## Proof of Hume's Principle from Basic Law V—Grundgesetze-Style

[Note: We use $$\epsilon F$$ to denote the extension of the concept $$F$$.]

Let $$P,Q$$ be arbitrarily chosen concepts. We want to show:

$$\#P\eqclose \#Q \equiv P\apprxclose Q$$

$$(\rightarrow)$$ Assume $$\#P = \#Q$$ (to show: $$P\approx Q$$). Note that since $$P\approx P$$ (Fact 2, subsection on Equinumerosity), we know by the Lemma for Hume's Principle that $$\epsilon P\in \#P$$. But then, by identity substitution, $$\epsilon P\in\#Q$$. So, again by the Lemma for Hume's Principle, $$P\approx Q$$.

$$(\leftarrow)$$ Assume $$P\approx Q$$ (to show: $$\#P = \#Q$$). By definition of $$\#$$, we have to show $$\epsilon P^{\approx} = \epsilon Q^{\approx}$$. So, by Basic Law V, we have to show $$\forall x(P^{\approx}x\equiv Q^{\approx}x)$$. We pick an arbitrary object $$b$$ (to show: $$P^{\approx}b \equiv Q^{\approx}b$$).

$$(\rightarrow)$$ Assume $$P^{\approx}b$$. Then, by definition of $$P^{\approx}$$ and $$\lambda$$-Conversion, $$\exists H(b\eqclose \epsilon H \amp H \apprxclose P)$$. Let $$R$$ be an arbitrary such concept; so $$b\eqclose \epsilon R\amp R\apprxclose P$$. From the second conjunct and our initial hypothesis, it follows (by the transitivity of equinumerosity) that $$R\apprxclose Q$$. So, reassembling what we know, it follows that $$b\eqclose \epsilon R\amp R\apprxclose Q$$. By existential generalization, it follows that $$\exists H(b\eqclose \epsilon H \amp H \apprxclose Q)$$. So by $$\lambda$$-Conversion,

$$[\lambda x \, \exists H(x\eqclose \epsilon H\amp H\apprxclose Q)]b$$

It follows from this, by definition of $$Q^{\approx}$$, that $$Q^{\approx}b$$.

$$(\leftarrow)$$ (Exercise)