#### Supplement to The Kochen-Specker Theorem

## Proof of Step 1

A given point a_{0} on the unit sphere E uniquely picks out a
unit vector from the origin to a_{0} which in turn uniquely
picks out a ray in R3 through the origin and a_{0}. We here
work with unit vectors, since this involves no loss of generality.
We write a_{0}, a_{1}, … for points and
u(a_{0}), u(a_{1}), … for the corresponding unit
vectors. We call a KS diagram realizable on E, if there is a 1:1
mapping of points of E, and thus of vectors in R3, to vertices of the
diagram such that the orthogonality relations in the diagram —
namely, vertices joined by a straight line represent mutually
orthogonal points — are satisfied by the corresponding
vectors.

We now show (see Kochen and Specker 1967: , Redhead 1987: 126):

If vectors u(a

_{0}) and u(a_{9}), corresponding to points a_{0}and a_{9}of the following ten-point KS graph Γ_{1}are separated by an angle θ with 0 ≤ θ ≤ sin^{−1}(1/3), then Γ_{1}is realizable.

Figure 4: Ten-point KS graph Γ_{1}

Suppose that
θ, the angle between
u(a_{0}) and u(a_{9}), is any acute angle. Since
u(a_{8}) is orthogonal to u(a_{0}) and
u(a_{9}), and u(a_{7}) also is orthogonal to
u(a_{9}), u(a_{7}) must lie in the plane defined by
u(a_{0}) and u(a_{9}). Moreover, the direction of
u(a_{7}) can be chosen such that, if
φ is the angle between u(a_{0})
and u(a_{7}), then
φ =
π/2 − θ.

Now, let u(a_{5}) = ** i** and
u(a_{6}) = **k** and choose a third vector
**j** such that **i**, ** j**,
**k** form a complete set of orthonormal vectors. Then
u(a_{1}), being orthogonal to **i**, may be
written as:

u(a_{1}) = (j+xk) (1 +x^{2})^{−½}

for a suitable real number *x*, and similarly
u(a_{2}), being orthogonal to **k**, may be
written as:

u(a_{2}) = (i+yj) (1 +y^{2})^{−½}

for a suitable real number *y*. But now the orthogonality
relations in the diagram yield:

u(a

_{3}) = u(a_{5}) × u(a_{1}) = (-xj+k) (1 +x^{2})^{−½}u(a

_{4}) = u(a_{2}) × u(a_{6}) = (yi−j) (1 +y^{2})^{−½}

Now, u(a_{0}) is orthogonal to u(a_{1}) and
u(a_{2}), so:

u(a_{0}) = u(a_{1}) × u(a_{2}) / ( | u(a_{1}) × u(a_{2}) | ) = (-xyi+xj−k) (1 +x^{2}+x^{2}y^{2})^{−½}

Similarly, u(a_{7}) is orthogonal to u(a_{3}) and
u(a_{4}), so:

u(a_{7}) = u(a_{4}) × u(a_{3}) / ( | u(a_{4}) × u(a_{3}) | ) = (-i−yj−xyk) (1 +y^{2}+x^{2}y^{2})^{−½}

Recalling now that the inner product of two unit vectors just equals the cosine of the angle between them, we get:

u(a_{0}) u(a_{7}) = cos φ =xy[(1 +x^{2}+x^{2}y^{2}) (1 +y^{2}+x^{2}y^{2})]^{−½}

Thus:

sin θ =xy[(1 +x^{2}+x^{2}y^{2}) (1 +y^{2}+x^{2}y^{2})]^{−½}

This expression achieves a maxium value of 1/3 for
*x* = *y* = ±1. Hence, the diagram is
realizable, if 0
≤
θ
≤
sin^{−1}(1/3),
or, equivalently if 0
≤
sin θ
≤ 1/3.