Notes to Ordinary Objects

1. Conservatives include Sanford (1993), Hirsch (1993, 2002a, 2005), Markosian (1998a, 2008, 2014), Elder (2004, 2011), Simons (2006), Lowe (2007), Koslicki (2008), Korman (2010, 2015b), Kriegel (2011), Carmichael (2015), and Beebee (forthcoming).

2. See van Inwagen (1990: 17) and Markosian (2000) for more on the relevant use of ‘object’. See Simons (1987: 11) on the reflexive use of ‘part’. See van Inwagen (1990: 29) for a more demanding use of ‘compose’, which prohibits things that share parts (e.g., my hand and fingers) from together composing something.

3. Hossack (2000), Dorr (2005), Grupp (2006), and Contessa (2014) defend the microphysicalist version of nihilism. Horgan (1991: §2, 1993: §2), Horgan and Potrč (2000, 2008: Ch. 7), and Rea (2001) defend existence monism; see Sider (2007a) for criticism. Sidelle (1998: §§4–6), Turner (2011), and Le Bihan (forthcoming) explore the extreme nihilist view that there are no objects; cf. Cowling (2014). See Siderits (2003: Ch. 4) for discussion of nihilism in the Buddhist tradition. See Williams (2006b: §5), Liggins (2008), Saucedo (2011: §6), Contessa (2014), and Goldwater (forthcoming) for attempts to reconcile nihilism with the existence of ordinary objects. See Merricks (2001: §1.1), Lowe (2005a: 527–531), Elder (2007: §1, 2011: §6.1), Williamson (2007: 219), Korman (2011), and Brenner (forthcoming) for discussion of the ‘arranged K-wise’ locution.

4. See van Inwagen (1990: Ch. 9) on organicism. Other eliminativists who make an exception for (at least some) organisms, but who do not necessarily endorse organicism, include Hoffman and Rosenkrantz (1997), Merricks (2001: §4.6, forthcoming), and Olson (2007: §§9.4–9.5). See Dowland (forthcoming) for a related view which eliminates organisms but makes an exception for brains. See also Lowe (2011: §§8–9) and Evnine (forthcoming a: Ch. 6) who affirm the existence of organisms and artifacts, but eliminate non-organic natural objects (like mountains).

5. The special composition question is due to van Inwagen (1990: Ch. 2); see Hestevold (1981) for a precursor, and see Markosian (1998a, 2008), Simons (2006: §§3–4), Vander Laan (2010), Silva (2013), Carmichael (2015), and Beebee (forthcoming) for further discussion. See van Inwagen (1990: 138–140), Zimmerman (1999: 121–122), Merricks (2001: Chs. 4–5), Rea (2001: §2.2), Eklund (2002: §§4–5), and Carroll and Carter (2005) on concerns about the stability of eliminativist views that make an exception for organisms.

6. See also Unger (1979a, 1979c, 1980), Heller (1990: §§2.4–2.5), Hoffman and Rosenkrantz (1997: Ch. 5), and Van Cleve (2008: §2).

7. The example of trout-turkeys is due to Lewis (1991: 7–8). Proponents of universalism include Leśniewski (1916/1922), Leonard and Goodman (1940), Goodman and Quine (1947), Cartwright (1975), Quine (1981a: 10), Thomson (1983: 216–217), Lewis (1986: 212–213, 1991: §1.3), Van Cleve (1986, 2008), Heller (1990: §2.9), Jubien (1993), Armstrong (1997: 13), Sider (1997: §3.1, 2001a: §4.9), Rea (1998), Fine (1999: 73), Hudson (2000, 2001: §3.8, 2006: 636), Varzi (2003), Bigelow and Pargetter (2006), Braddon-Mitchell and Miller (2006), Baker (2007: 191–193), Schaffer (2009b: 358), Parsons (2013: 328), Noonan (2014: 1057), Sattig (2015: 13–14), and Cotnoir (forthcoming a, forthcoming b). Critics include Comesaña (2008), Elder (2008, 2011: Ch. 7), Effingham (2011b, 2011c), and Evnine (forthcoming a: §6.2.1); others will be cited below in connection with specific arguments.

8. The example of klables is due to Shoemaker (1979, 1988: 201). See Sider (1997: §3.3, 2001a: §4.9.3) in defense of diachronic universalism; see Markosian (2004: §2), Balashov (2005, 2007) and Miller (2005: 321–322) for criticism. Note that, while many four-dimensionalists accept diachronic universalism, it is not entailed by four-dimensionalism (see Heller 1993), nor is it clear that it entails four-dimensionalism (see Lowe 2005b, Miller 2005, Heller 2008: 91–93, Kurtsal Steen 2010, and Magidor 2015 and forthcoming: §3.1).

9. The example of incars is due to Hirsch (1976: §2, 1982: 32). Advocates of the doctrine of plenitude (or something in the vicinity) include Fine (1982: 100, 1999: 73), Sosa (1987: 178–179, 1999: 142–143), Yablo (1987: 307), Hawley (2001: 6–7), Bennett (2004: §4), Hawthorne (2006: vii–viii), Johnston (2006: §17), Thomasson (2007: §10.3), Eklund (2008: §4), Cameron (2014: 103–104), Inman (2014), Sattig (2015: 25), and Cotnoir (forthcoming b). See Eklund (2006: 111–115), Elder (2011: §1.4), and Evnine (forthcoming b: §5.4) for criticism; others critics will be cited below in connection with specific arguments.

10. Proponents of DAUP include Carter (1983), Zimmerman (1996: §4), and Hudson (2001: 88). For criticism, see van Inwagen (1981), Markosian (1998: 242–243), and McDaniel (2007: 138–141).

11. Arguments of this sort have been advanced by Unger (1979a, 1979b, 1979c), Wheeler (1979: §3), and Horgan and Potrč (2008: §2.4).

12. See Heller (1990: §2.8), Merricks (2001: §2.2), and Horgan and Potrč (2008: §2.4).

13. See Sanford (1979: §1), Tye (1990: §3), Elder (2000: §1), Sider (2001a: 188), and Thomasson (2007: §5.3).

14. See Unger (1979a: §3, 1979b: 128–130), Heller (1990: §§2.8–2.10), Williamson (1994: §4.6), and Horgan and Potrč (2008: 25–26). See Williamson (1994: Ch. 6) on the broader repercussions of embracing sorites reasoning.

15. The argument is advanced by Lewis (1986: 212–213), Sider (1997: §3.1, 2001a: §4.9.1), Varzi (2005), and Van Cleve (2008: §3), all of whom put the argument to work in defense of universalism. See Heller (2000) for a related argument. See Noonan (2010) on the relation between Lewis's and Sider's formulations of the argument. Sider (1997: §3.3, 2001a: §4.9.3, 2008a: §4) shows how a structurally similar argument can be given for diachronic universalism; see Koslicki (2003: §3) and Balashov (2005: §3) for criticism. See Wallace (2014), Graham (2015), and Korman (2015b: 18–19) for modalized versions of the argument. 

16. See Markosian (1998a: 237–239, 2004: 668–669), Sider (2001a: 123–124 and 130–132), Merricks (2005, 2007), Hawthorne (2006: 107–109), Nolan (2006: 725–728), Simons (2006: 603–604), Smith (2006), Barnes (2007), Cameron (2007: 114–117), Tahko (2009), Kurtsal Steen (2014), and Korman (2015b: Ch. 9.3) for discussion of AV3. See Horgan (1993: §1), Markosian (1998a: §3), Hudson (2001: 22–25), Sider (2001a: 123–124 and 130–132), and Gabriel (forthcoming) on brute compositional facts.

17. Merricks (2005: §5) and Hawthorne (2006: 106–109) defend this sort of strategy. See Papineau (1993: §4.8), Tye (1996b), and Antony (2006, 2008) on the possibility of borderline cases of consciousness.

18. See Howard-Snyder (1997: §4) and Sider (1997: 21–22, 2001a: 125–127).

19. Carmichael (2011) defends this line of response. For other attempts to secure vague composition without vague existence, see Smith (2005), Hawthorne (2006: 106), Baker (2007: 130–132), Donnelly (2009: §5), Effingham (2009), Elder (2011: §7.1), Wake (2011: §3), Woodward (2011: §3), Williamson (2013: 7 n.9), Nolan (2014: §5), Korman and Carmichael (forthcoming a: §4.4), and Magidor (forthcoming: §3.2.2); cf. Gallois (2004: 652).

20. For discussion of vague quantifiers and vague existence, see van Inwagen (1990: Ch. 19), Hirsch (1999: 149–151, 2000: 42–43, 2002b: 65–66, 2004a: 663, 2008b: 376), Hossack (2000: 428), Sider (2001a: 128–130, 2003a, 2009a), Hawley (2002, 2004), Koslicki (2003, 2008: 34–40), Barnes (2005, 2013), Dorr (2005: 248 n.25), López de Sa (2006), Liebesman and Eklund (2007), Campdelacreu (2010), Woodward (2011: §5), Korman (2014b, 2015b: §9.5), and Torza (forthcoming).

21. The example of Piece and Athena is due to Paul (2006: 625). See Rea (1995) for discussion of the different varieties of constitution puzzles. See Fine (2003, 2006), Bennett (2004: 340–341), Frances (2006), King (2006), and Almotahari (2014, forthcoming) for discussion of versions of the puzzle that turn on putative nonmodal differences. See Wallace (2011a: 804–805) and Cameron (2014: 98–99) on the colocation of objects and their parts.

22. See Heller (1990: §§2.4–2.7), van Inwagen (1990: 125–127), Hoffman and Rosenkrantz (1997: §5.2), Merricks (2001: §2.3), and Olson (2007: §9.4).  

23. Proponents of constitutional pluralism include: Quine (1953: §1), Wiggins (1968, 2001), Perry (1970: §5), Kripke (1971: n.19), Chisholm (1973: 590–591 and 601–602), Doepke (1982, 1986b), Fine (1982, 1999, 2003, 2008), Hirsch (1982: 57–64, 2002a: §3, 2005: §5), Lowe (1983a, 1983b, 1989: Ch. 5, 2002, 2009: Ch. 6), Thomson (1983: §6, 1998), Simons (1987: Ch. 6), Yablo (1987), Heller (1984: 332–333), Johnston (1992, 2006: §8), Lewis (1993: 167–168), Tye (1996a: 222), Baker (1997, 2000, 2007), Mackie (2008), Hudson (2001: 57–61), McDaniel (2001: §3, 2004: §4), Paul (2002: §5, 2006), Moyer (2006), Thomasson (2006: §4, 2007: Ch. 4), Koslicki (2008), Cotnoir (2010), Crane (2012), Shoemaker (2012), Korman (2015b: Ch. 11), and Evnine (forthcoming a: §1.1.1). The labels ‘pluralism’ and ‘monism’ are from Fine (2003).

24. The grounding problem is advanced by Heller (1990: §2.1, 2008: 94–97), Burke (1992), Sidelle (1992a: 288, 2014), Zimmerman (1995: §9), Olson (1996: §3, 2001), Hawley (2001: 146–148), Merricks (2001: 39–40), and Shagrir (2002). For responses to the problem, see Sosa (1987: 173–178), Baker (1997: §2, 2000: 185–189), Rea (1997b: §4), Corcoran (1999: 16–17), Lowe (2002), Wasserman (2002), Bennett (2004: §4), Hawley (2006: §4), Hawthorne (2006: 101–103), Johnston (2006: §9), Moyer (2006: §6.2), Paul (2006: §5), Thomasson (2007: §4.4), Fine (2008), Sider (2008b), Koslicki (2008: 179–183), Mackie (2008: 167–168), deRosset (2011), Einheuser (2011), Crane (2012: §5), Sutton (2012), Wilson (2013: 379), Korman (2015b: §11.3), Saenz (2015), Sattig (2015: §5.2), Evnine (forthcoming a: §3.2.3), Jago (forthcoming), and Korman and Carmichael (forthcoming a: §5.2). See Bennett (2004) for an argument that the grounding problem is best solved by embracing something like the doctrine of plenitude, and see her (2009: 70–71) for a grounding problem for monists.

25. The example is due to Spolaore (2012). For further discussion of same-kind coincidence, see Shorter (1977), Simons (1985), Doepke (1986a), Oderberg (1996), Hughes (1997), Fine (2000, 2008: 106), Hershenov (2003), Johnston (2006: §§9–10), Korman (2015b: §11.1.2), and Evnine (forthcoming a: §3.4.3).

26. Phasalists include Ayers (1974: 128–129), Price (1977), Tichý (1987/2004: §3), and Jubien (1993: 37–40, 2001: 7); see Sidelle (1998: §2) and Korman (2015b: §11.1.1) for criticism.

27. Burke (1994a, 1994b, 2004) and Rea (2000) defend the doctrine of dominant kinds. See Denkel (1995), Lowe (1995), Sider (2001a: 163–165, 2008a: §3.3), Stone (2002), and Korman (2015b: §11.1.2) for criticism.

28. See Lewis (1971, 1986: §4.5), Gibbard (1975: §5), Noonan (1988, 1991, 1993: §1), Mackie (2007, 2008: §4), Fara (2008, 2012: §2), and Cray (2014) for the first version (or something in the vicinity); see Sidelle (2010: 121–122), Barker and Jago (2014), and Korman (2015b: §11.1.3) for criticism. See Heil (2003: 186–187) and Dyke (2008: 144–149) on the second version. See Sattig (2015: Ch. 3) for an attempt to resolve the puzzle without denying any of MC1–MC4; see Korman (2015c) for criticism. See the entry on material constitution for a more detailed discussion of these issues.

29. This version of the puzzle of the Ship of Theseus—in which a second ship is constructed from the discarded planks—is due to Hobbes (1655: II.11.7). The reasoning here is due to Evans (1978) and Salmon (1981: 243–246). Those who do not find themselves gripped by this particular example may replace it with an example of an amoeba dividing in two (see Robinson 1985).

30. Van Inwagen (1990: 128–135), Hoffman and Rosenkrantz (1997: §5.4), and Hossack (2000: 428) put the reasoning to work in defense of eliminativism.

31. See Lewis (1988) and Stalnaker (1988: 349–350).

32. See Lewis (1976: §3), Robinson (1985), Simons (1987: §5.5), Shoemaker (1988: 208–209), Stalnaker (1988), and Moyer (2008: §3). See Hirsch (1999) for an alternative strategy for resisting ST2.

33. See Chisholm (1976: Ch. 3), Sider (1996: §2), and Hawley (2001: Ch. 4) on ST1; Lowe (1994: 113) on ST2; van Inwagen (1990: 251–252) and Lowe (2011: 20–32) on ST3; and Parsons (1987: 8–11) and Thomasson (2007: §5.6) on ST4.

34. For arguments from arbitrariness for permissivism, see Cartwright (1975: 167), Quine (1981a: 13), Ginet (1985: 220–221), Van Cleve (1986: 145, 2008: §2), Yablo (1987: 307), Heller (1993: 59), Rea (1998: 354–355), Sosa (1999), Hudson (2001: 108–112), Johnston (2006: 696–698), Moyer (2006: 408), Schaffer (2009: 358 n.11), Parsons (2013: 333), Noonan (2014), and Beebee (forthcoming: §4); cf. Sider (2001a: 165, 2008a: 260) and Sidelle (1992b: 417–418, 2002: 119–120).

35. See van Inwagen (1981: §3, 1990: 126), Olson (1995: §1), Hoffman and Rosenkrantz (1997: 177–178), Rea (2001: §2.2), and Van Cleve (2008: §2) for eliminativist responses to arbitrariness arguments.

36. See Goodman (1978), Putnam (1981: 52–54), Sidelle (1992a: §7), and Einheuser (2006, 2011) for defense of anti-realism. See Shoemaker (1988), Hoffman and Rosenkrantz (1997: 178–179), Lowe (2007), Korman (2010: §5, 2015b: Ch. 8), and Effingham (2011b: §6) for realist responses to arbitrariness arguments.

37. See Putnam (1987, 1994), Hawthorne and Cortens (1995: 158–160), and Hirsch (2000: 44, 2002b, 2004b: 135–136,  2011: xi–xvi).

38. See Joyce (2006: Ch. 6), Street (2006), and Vavova (2015) on structurally similar, moral debunking arguments. See Rose and Schaffer (forthcoming) and Korman and Carmichael (forthcoming b) on a debunking argument from experimental philosophy.

39.Van Inwagen (1981: §3), Heller (1990: 41–42), Merricks (2001: 72–76, forthcoming), Sider (2013: §2), and Benovsky (forthcoming: §2) all advance debunking arguments (or something in the vicinity) in support of eliminativism; cf. Jubien (1993: §1.1).

40. See Yablo (1987: 307), Shoemaker (1988: 209), Hawley (2001: 6–7), Hudson (2001: §3.8, 2006: 636), Sider (2001a: 156–157), Witmer (2003: 606), Nolan (2005: 35), Hawthorne (2006: vi and 109), Moyer (2006: 408), and Sattig (2015: 25–26). See Korman (2014a: §3, 2015b: §7.3) for criticism.

41. See Hirsch (2004b: §1) on deflationary treatments; see Korman (2014a: §4.1) for criticism.

42. See Rea (2002: Ch. 9) on intelligent design, and see Korman (2014a: §7, 2015b: §7.6) and Osborne (forthcoming) on intellectual apprehension. See Korman (2015b: §7.4) for an argument that DK1 cannot be resisted simply by pointing to the causal relations between objects and our beliefs about them.

43. The argument is due to Merricks (2001: Ch. 3, forthcoming), though it is closely related to earlier causal exclusion arguments in the philosophy of mind.

44. See Merricks (2001: 61–66, 2003: §1) in defense of OD1. See Baker (2003: 598), Lowe (2003, 2005a: 526–531), Kim (2005: 56), Elder (2007: §3, 2011: §6.3), and Parsons (2013: 332–333) for attempts to resist OD1. See Merricks (2001: Ch. 4, 2003: §§1–2), Dorr (2003), and Carroll and Carter (2005) on whether persons and other conscious composites escape overdetermination arguments by virtue of having nonredundant causal powers.

45. See Merricks (2001: 57) on causal relevance. See Bernstein (forthcoming: §1) on varying uses of ‘overdetermination’.

46. See Merricks (2001: 66–72), Olson (2002: §6), Sider (2003b: 722–723), Carroll and Carter (2005: §7), Thomasson (2006: §1, 2007: Ch. 1), Schaffer (2007: §8), Bennett (2009: 68), Yang (2013), Korman (2015b: §10.2), Árnadóttir (forthcoming), Beebee (forthcoming), and Bernstein (forthcoming: §§2–3) for relevant discussion.

47. See Merricks (2001: 72–79, 2003: §3, forthcoming), Sider (2003b: 723–725), Korman (2015b: §10.2–10.3), and Beebee (forthcoming) for discussion.

48. The principle is controversial because numbers and other abstracta, if they exist, are plausibly causally inert. See Merricks (2001: 80–81) on OD4. For general discussion of the Eleatic Principle, see Armstrong (1978: 139), Oddie (1982), Colyvan (1998), Cowling (forthcoming), and the papers in Topoi (2003: v. 22.2).

49. The problem is due to Geach (1980: §110) and Unger (1980). See Chihara (1994), Hudson (2001: Ch. 1), Unger (2004, 2005: Ch. 7), Hawthorne (2006: Ch. 9), and O'Connor (2007) for special problems that arise in connection with persons. Olson (2007: 224–225) puts the problem of the many to work in an argument against universalism.

50. See Lewis (1976: §2), Quine (1981b: 92–93), Hirsch (1982: 40–42), Hoffman and Rosenkrantz (1997: §5.3), Hawley (2001: 166), Sider (2001b: §1), Burke (2003), Kovacs (2010), Williams (2013: §§5–9), Sutton (2014), and Korman (2015b: §12.1) on maximal properties.

51. See Quine (1981b: 93), Lewis (1993: 166–167), and Hawley (2001: 167) on this strategy for fortifying the problem. See van Inwagen (1990: 216–217) and Korman (2015b: §12.1) on how the puzzle arises even for those who deny that there is such an object as Woodrow-minus (e.g., because they deny DAUP).

52. See Lewis (1993: 171–175), McGee and McLaughlin (2000), McKinnon (2002), Weatherson (2003: §§3–5), Williams (2006a), López de Sa (2014), Korman (2015b: §12.2), and Sattig (2015: §7.1) for discussion.

53. See Lowe (1982, 1995, 2011: §2.6), Johnston (1992: §4), Tye (1996a: §3), Wilson (2013: 377–379), and Korman (2015b: §12.3) for the constitutional pluralist response; see Noonan (1993), Williams (2013: 447–448), and Sattig (2015: §7.2) for criticism.

54. Chisholm (1973: 589–590, 1976: §3.4, 1986: 69–70), Kim (1976: §3), Noonan (1993: 139), Lewis (1993: 177–180), Unger (2004: 203), Williams (2006a), and López de Sa (2014: §§7–11) endorse the permissive response (or something in the vicinity); cf. Leslie (2011). Unger (1980), Heller (1990: 38), Horgan (1993: §2), and Horgan and Potrč (2008: §2.4.4) endorse the eliminative response; see Bennett (2009: 66–67) for criticism. See the entry on the problem of the many for a more detailed discussion of these issues.

55. See van Inwagen (1987: §3, 1990: 73), Markosian (1998a: §4), Hirsch (2002a), Koslicki (2007: §4.3.2), Elder (2008: 440), Kelly (2008), Sider (2008a: 254), Schaffer (2009b: 358), Kriegel (2011), Korman (2015b: Ch. 4), and Evnine (forthcoming a: §6.2.1) for arguments from counterexamples (or something in the vicinity) against various revisionary ontologies.

56. Proponents of this strategy include Lewis (1986: 213, 1991: §3.5), Sosa (1999: 142), Jubien (2001: 14 n.2), Sider (2001a: 218, 2004: 680), Rosen and Dorr (2002: §4), Varzi (2003: 213–214), Richard (2006: 173), Cameron (2007: 116, 2008c: 14), and Keller (forthcoming: §4.2.2).

57. See van Inwagen (1990: Chs. 10–11, 2014: 1–14), Horgan (1991: §2), Olson (1995: 189–190), Merricks (2000: 49–50), Sider (2004: 680–681, 2009b: §11, 2011: §5.3 and §9.3, 2013: §3, 2014: 565), Dorr (2005: §7, 2008: §1), Thomasson (2007: §10.3), Cameron (2008a: 300–301, 2010a: 256, 2010b: 25), Horgan and Potrč (2008: Ch. 3), Chalmers (2009: §2), Cotnoir (2013b), Keller (forthcoming), and Rettler (forthcoming: §4) for further compatibilist strategies.

58. See Noonan (1992: 240–241, 2014: 1058–1061), Tye (1992), Mackie (1993), Hawthorne and Cortens (1995: 156–157), Hawthorne and Michael (1996: §2), Markosian (1998a: §4, 2008: §§3–4), Hirsch (2000: 42, 2002a: 109–112, 2002b: 64–65, 2004b: 136–137, 2008a: §5, 2008b: 370–371), Merricks (2001: §7.1), Varzi (2002: 65), Uzquiano (2004), Korman (2008b, 2009: §3, 2015b: Chs. 5–6), Wallace (2013), and Rose and Schaffer (forthcoming: §3.6) for criticism of various compatibilist strategies. See Keller (forthcoming) for a response to these sorts of complaints. McGrath (2005), Bennett (2009: §9), and Nolan (2010) show how counterparts of the arguments for eliminativism cause trouble for the ordinary utterances that compatibilist eliminativists wish to affirm.

59. For a variety of incompatibilist strategies, see Unger (1979b: 150), Heller (1990: Ch. 4), van Inwagen (1993: 712), Merricks (2001: §§7.2–7.3), Rosen and Dorr (2002: §§4–5), Sider (2004: 680), Eklund (2005), Olson (2007: 222), and Horgan and Potrč (2008: §6.2.2). See Korman (2009) for discussion of the constraints on a satisfactory incompatibilist account.

60. The argument from charity is due to Hirsch (2002a, 2002b: §6, 2004a, 2005, 2008b). See Davidson (1974: 19, 1989/2008: 130–2), Grandy (1973: §1), Lewis (1974: 336–337), Gauker (1986), Hirsch (2005: §5), and Williamson (2007: Ch. 8) for general discussion of principles of charity.

61. See Hirsch (2002a: §§3–4, 2005: 88–89, 2008b: 372–373) for criticism of this line of response. See Hirsch (2008a) and McGrath (2008) for further discussion of conflicts of charity. Sattig (2015: Ch. 3) defends an interpretation on which all of MC1–MC4 come out true.

62. See Lewis (1974: 336), Hirsch (2002a: 105–106, 2005: 78, 2008b: 370), and Korman (2008a, 2008b: 324–325, 2015b: §4.4) for relevant discussion.

63. See Merrill (1980: 77–80), Lewis (1983: 370–377, 1984: 226–229), Sider (2001a: xxi–xxiv), and Williams (2007) on the role of naturalness—or “reference magnets”—in accounts of content determination. Sider (2004: 679–682, 2009b: §11) and Keller (forthcoming: §4.2.3) advance an argument from naturalness against CH2; see Hirsch (2002a: §5, 2005: §6, 2008a: §5, 2008b: 377–378, 2009: 243–244) for criticism.

64. See Korman (2015b: §5.5.1, 2015c), Sattig (2015: 72–73 and 89–90) and Keller (forthcoming: §4) on arguments from charity for compatibilism. See Dorr (2005) for an argument from charity for nihilism. For further discussion of arguments from charity, see Hawthorne (2009), Hirsch (2013), Jackson (2013), and Horden (2014).

65. See Baxter (1988), Wallace (2011a, 2011b), Cotnoir (2013), and Turner’s C (2013) for defense of this “composition as identity” thesis (a.k.a. CAI).

66. See Lewis (1991: 87), van Inwagen (1994), Yi (1999), Merricks (2001: §1.4), McKay (2006: 36–42), Sider (2007b: §3.3), McDaniel (2008), Turner’s N (2013), Cameron (2014: §1), and Korman (2015b: 16) against the thesis that composition is identity. See Harte (2002: 114), Merricks (2005: 629–631), Cameron (2007: 104, 2012), Sider (2007b: 61–62), and McDaniel (2010b) on whether the thesis that composition is identity entails universalism. See the papers in Cotnoir and Baxter (2014) for further discussion of composition as identity.

67. See Sidelle (1989: 161–166), Devitt and Sterelny (1999: §4.5), and Thomasson (2007: Ch. 2, 2009, 2015: 95) on the qua problem.

68. The argument from application conditions is due to Thomasson (2007: §1.2 and §9.4). Thomasson herself defends the stronger claim that ET2 is analytic, on account of the fact that these application conditions enter into the content of ‘statue’ and the associated concept. See Bennett (2009: 56), Schaffer (2009a: §1), Thomasson (2015: Ch. 7), deRosset (forthcoming) and Horden (forthcoming) for further discussion of such analytic entailments.

69. See Thomasson (2007: 157–159, 2009, 2015: 108–111), Schaffer (2009a), Korman (2015b: §4.4, forthcoming), and Evnine (forthcoming a: §6.2.3, forthcoming b) for discussion of this line of response.

70. Both arguments are due to van Inwagen: see his (1981) for the argument against DAUP and his (1987: 35–40, 1990: 75–80) for the argument against universalism; cf. Koslicki (2008: 4) against universalism.

71. See Noonan (1992: 241–242), Rea (1998: §1, 1999), McGrath (1998), Eklund (2002: §7), Hudson (2001: 93–95), McDaniel (2001: §5), Merricks (2009: 302), and Korman (2015b: §9.6.2) for discussion of the argument against universalism.

72. See Carter (1983), Burke (1994b), and Parsons (2004) on the argument against DAUP.

73. See Sider (1993, 2003b: 724–725), Hudson (2007), Van Cleve (2008: 325), Effingham (2011a), and Markosian (2015: 672–673) for relevant discussion.

74. See Zimmerman (1996: 8), Markosian (1998b: §4), Lowe (2000: 20), and Holden (2004: §2.3) on the first response, and see Williams (2006b: 504–506) and Korman and Carmichael (forthcoming a: §6.1) on the second.

75. See Nolan (2005: 36), Rosen (2006), Cameron (2007), Bohn (2009a, 2009b: §1), Miller (2009), Parsons (2013), and Sider (2013: §10) on the contingency of composition. See, in particular, Bohn (2009b: 196) on applying Hume's Dictum to overlapping objects. See Cameron (2008b) and Wilson (2010) for general discussion of Hume's Dictum.

76. See Bohn (2009a, 2009b), Schaffer (2010: 64–65), Watson (2010), Contessa (2012), Spencer (2012: §2), and Cotnoir (2014) for discussion of junk.

77. See Hawthorne and Cortens (1995), Markosian (2005: §3), Schaffer (2007: §8, 2010), Horgan and Potrč (2008), Cameron (2008c: §3, 2010a, 2014: §3), Dasgupta (2009), McDaniel (2010a: 641–642), Sider (2013), French (2014: Ch. 7), Korman (2015a, 2015b: Ch. 6), Skiles (2015: §3), Carmichael (forthcoming), and Rettler (forthcoming) for views on which ordinary objects exist but—in one sense or another—are not among the fundamental constituents of reality. See the entry on metaphysical grounding for a more detailed discussion of fundamentality.

78. Though see Schaffer (2010: §2.4) for an argument from the possibility of gunk that the entire (composite) cosmos must be more fundamental than any of its concrete parts.

79. See McDaniel (2010a: 644, forthcoming: §5.4), Korman (2015a: §4, 2015b: §6.3), and Korman and Carmichael (forthcoming a: §6.2) for relevant discussion.

80. See Cowling (2013: §8), Sider (2013: §1), Cameron (2010a: 262–263, 2014: 100–101), and Korman (2015a: §4, 2015b: §6.3.2) on arguments from parsimony.

Copyright © 2016 by
Daniel Z. Korman <dzkorman@gmail.com>

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