## Notes to Defeasible Reasoning

1. Gärdernfors proved that no non-trivial belief revision system satisfies the following five conditions:

- The set of belief states is closed under expansions.
- Success: \(A\) belongs to \(K*A\).
- Consistency: if \(K\) and \(A\) are both consistent, then so is \(K*A\).
- Ramsey test: \((A \Rightarrow B) \in K\) iff \(B \in K*A\).
- Preservation: if \(\neg A \not\in K\), then \(K \subseteq K*A\).

2. There is another
desirable property that is independent of the ones discussed here:
*infinite conditionalization*: \(C(\Gamma \cup \Delta) \subseteq Cn(\Gamma \cup C(\Delta))\). The
study of nonmonotonic Tarski relations (in which the set of premises
can be infinite) is still relatively undeveloped (although see
Makinson 1994 and Freund, Lehmann, and Makinson 1990).

3. Karl Schlechta (Schlechta
1997) has proved that the restriction of these theorem to
*finite* models is a necessary one. In order to cover the case
of infinite theories, it is necessary to add yet another condition to
the preferential models: a condition Schlechta calls
“definability preservation” (Schlechta 1997, 76).

4. Adams’s logic of high
conditional probability also corresponds closely to the logic of
subjunctive or counterfactual conditionals developed by Robert
Stalnaker and David K. Lewis (Lewis 1973). By deleting both weak
centering and the *CV* axiom (which corresponds to Rational
Montonoty) from Lewis’s favored logic, *VC*, Adams’s logic
results. Adding axiom *CV* produces a logic corresponding to
the Lehmann-Magidor-Pearl 1-entailment (see below). The correspondence
between counterfactual logics and preferential logics was first noted
by Adam Grove (Grove 1988).

5. Admissibility has also known as
“\(p\)-consistency” (Adams 1975) and
“\(\varepsilon\)-consistency” (Pearl 1988). A preferential
consequence relation is *admissible* if and only if, for every
\(\varepsilon \gt 0\), there exists a probability function \(P\) such
that, for all propositions \(p\) and \(q, p \dproves q\) iff \(P(q \mid p)
\ge 1 - \varepsilon\).

6. The *entropy* of a
probability function is a measure of the expectation of
information. To simplify, suppose that there are finitely many
models. The entropy of a function \(P\) is the sum, over all the
models \(\mathcal{M}\) of the product of the probability of
\(\mathcal{M}\) and the negative logarithm (base 2) of that
probability.

7. Wayne Wobcke’s (Wobcke 1995) system is an alternative to Commonsense Entailment that allows a limited amount of nesting. Both Delgrande and Asher use conditional logics that are significantly weaker than either Ernest Adam’s or David Lewis’s \(VC\) (minus Centering).

8. Under an extension of 1-entailment or the maximum entropy approach, we could defeasibly infer that \(\neg q\) is not exceptional, that is, that \(\neg(\top \Rightarrow q)\), unless the exceptional character of \(\neg q\) follows monotonically from our theory. (The symbol \(\top\) represents any logical tautology.) From \((p \Rightarrow q)\) and \(\neg(\top \Rightarrow q)\), the contraposed conditional \((\neg q \Rightarrow \neg p)\) follows monotonically (in \(VC\) minus centering), as the following derivation shows:

\((p \Rightarrow q)\) | [Assumption] |

\(\neg(\top \Rightarrow q)\) | [Assumption] |

\((p \Rightarrow(\neg p \vee q))\) | [1, right weakening] |

\((\neg p \Rightarrow \neg p)\) | [Reflexivity] |

\((\neg p \Rightarrow(\neg p \vee q))\) | [4, right weakening] |

\(((p \vee \neg p) \Rightarrow(\neg p \vee q))\) | [3, 5, Or] |

\((\top \Rightarrow (\neg p \vee q))\) | [6, Left equivalence] |

\(((\top \amp \neg q) \Rightarrow(\neg p \vee q))\) | [2, 7, CV] |

\((\neg q \Rightarrow(\neg p \vee q))\) | [8, Left equivalence] |

\((\neg q \Rightarrow \neg q)\) | [Reflexivity] |

\((\neg q \Rightarrow \neg p)\) | [9, 10, right conjunction, right weakening] |

9. Morgan also gives us good reason to reject the principle of absorption for conditionals:

\((p \Rightarrow(q \Rightarrow r)) \leftrightarrow((p \amp q) \Rightarrow r)\)

This principle of absorption holds in the logic of extreme
higher-order probabilities *only* in the special case where
\(p\) consists entirely of Boolean combinations of
\(\Rightarrow\)-conditionals.

10. Andrew Baker (Baker 1988) offers a solution to the Yale shooting problem with the resources of circumscription, by altering which predicates are allowed to vary and which are held fixed. Baker’s solution is not an exception to my claim, however, since his solution involves making a critical distinction between the role of causal and non-causal information.