Notes to Set Theory: Constructive and Intuitionistic ZF

1. Note that one could also choose to leave out foundation (and set-induction) altogether. One may then wish to add an axiom, called antifoundation, which allows for the formation of non-well-founded sets, also called hypersets (see Aczel 1988 or Barwise and Moss 1996). In fact, a constructive treatment of non-well-founded sets can be given which mirrors the classical one (see for example Rathjen 2004). Further, by using a construction by Hällnas and Lindström of non-well-founded sets as limits of finite approximations (Lindström 1989), one can see that in constructive contexts the antifoundation axiom comes as proof-theoretically “inexpensive” if compared with set induction (Rathjen 2003).

2. Inaccessible sets in CZF corresponds in ZFC to \(V_k\) for \(k\) a strongly inaccessible cardinal, where \(V_k\) denotes the \(k\)-th level of the von Neumann hierarchy (Crosilla and Rathjen 2001).

Copyright © 2019 by
Laura Crosilla <>

Open access to the SEP is made possible by a world-wide funding initiative.
The Encyclopedia Now Needs Your Support
Please Read How You Can Help Keep the Encyclopedia Free