“Affirmative action” means positive steps taken to increase the representation of women and minorities in areas of employment, education, and culture from which they have been historically excluded. When those steps involve preferential selection—selection on the basis of race, gender, or ethnicity—affirmative action generates intense controversy.
The development, defense, and contestation of preferential affirmative action has proceeded along two paths. One has been legal and administrative as courts, legislatures, and executive departments of government have made and applied rules requiring affirmative action. The other has been the path of public debate, where the practice of preferential treatment has spawned a vast literature, pro and con. Often enough, the two paths have failed to make adequate contact, with the public quarrels not always very securely anchored in any existing legal basis or practice.
The ebb and flow of public controversy over affirmative action can be pictured as two spikes on a line, the first spike representing a period of passionate debate that began around 1972 and tapered off after 1980, and the second indicating a resurgence of debate in the 1990s leading up to the Supreme Court's decision in the summer of 2003 upholding certain kinds of affirmative action. The first spike encompassed controversy about gender and racial preferences alike. This is because in the beginning affirmative action was as much about the factory, the firehouse, and the corporate suite as about the college campus. The second spike represents a quarrel about race and ethnicity. This is because the burning issue at the turn of the twentieth-first century is about college admissions. In admissions to selective colleges, women need no boost; African-Americans and Hispanics do.
- 1. In the Beginning
- 2. The Controversy Engaged
- 3. Rights and Consistency
- 4. Real World Affirmative Action: The Workplace
- 5. Real World Affirmative Action: The University
- 6. Equality's Rule
- 7. Diversity's Dominion
- 8. The Integration Argument
- 9. A Blip
- 10. Desert Confounded, Desert Misapplied
- Academic Tools
- Other Internet Resources
- Related Entries
In 1972, affirmative action became an inflammatory public issue. True enough, the Civil Rights Act of 1964 already had made something called “affirmative action” a remedy federal courts could impose on violators of the Act. Likewise, after 1965 federal contractors had been subject to President Lyndon Johnson's Executive Order 11246, requiring them to take “affirmative action” to make sure they were not discriminating. But what did this 1965 mandate amount to? The Executive Order assigned to the Secretary of Labor the job of specifying rules of implementation. In the meantime, as the federal courts were enforcing the Civil Rights Act against discriminating companies, unions, and other institutions, the Department of Labor mounted an ad hoc attack on the construction industry by cajoling, threatening, negotiating, and generally strong-arming reluctant construction firms into a series of region-wide “plans” in which they committed themselves to numerical hiring goals. Through these contractor commitments, the Department could indirectly pressure recalcitrant labor unions, who supplied the employees at job sites.
While the occasional court case and government initiative made the news and stirred some controversy, affirmative action was pretty far down the list of public excitements until the autumn of 1972, when the Secretary of Labor's Revised Order No. 4, fully implementing the Executive Order, landed on campus by way of directives from the Department of Health, Education, and Welfare. Its predecessor, Order No. 4, first promulgated in 1970, cast a wide net over American institutions, both public and private. By extending to all contractors the basic apparatus of the construction industry “plans,” the Order imposed a one-size-fits-all system of “underutilization analyses,” “goals,” and “timetables” on hospitals, banks, trucking companies, steel mills, printers, airlines—indeed, on all the scores of thousands of institutions, large and small, that did business with the government, including a special set of institutions with a particularly voluble and articulate constituency, namely, American universities.
At first, university administrators and faculty found the rules of Order No. 4 murky but hardly a threat to the established order. The number of racial and ethnic minorities receiving PhDs each year and thus eligible for faculty jobs was tiny. Any mandate to increase their representation on campus would require more diligent searches by universities, to be sure, but searches fated nevertheless largely to mirror past results. The 1972 Revised Order, on the other hand, effected a change that punctured any campus complacency: it included women among the “protected classes” whose “underutilization” demanded the setting of “goals” and “timetables” for “full utilization” (Graham 1990, 413). Unlike African-Americans and Hispanics, women were getting PhDs in substantial and growing numbers. If the affirmative action required of federal contractors was a recipe for “proportional representation,” then Revised Order No. 4 was bound to leave a large footprint on campus. Some among the professoriate exploded in a fury of opposition to the new rules, while others responded with an equally vehement defense of them.
As it happened, these events coincided with another development, namely the “public turn” in philosophy. For several decades Anglo-American philosophy had treated moral and political questions obliquely. On the prevailing view, philosophers were suited only to do “conceptual analysis”—they could lay bare, for example, the conceptual architecture of the idea of justice, but they were not competent to suggest political principles, constitutional arrangements, or social policies that actually did justice. Philosophers might do “meta-ethics” but not “normative ethics.” This viewed collapsed in the 1970s under the weight of two counter-blows. First, John Rawls published in 1971 A Theory of Justice, an elaborate, elegant, and inspiring defense of a normative theory of justice (Rawls 1971). Second, in the same year Philosophy & Public Affairs, with Princeton University's impeccable pedigree, began life, a few months after Florida State's Social Theory and Practice. These journals, along with a re-tooled older periodical, Ethics, became self-conscious platforms for socially and politically engaged philosophical writing, born out of the feeling that in time of war (the Vietnam War) and social tumult (the Civil Rights Movement, Women's Liberation), philosophers ought to do, not simply talk about, ethics. In 1973, Philosophy & Public Affairs published Thomas Nagel's “Equal Treatment and Compensatory Justice” (Nagel 1973) and Judith Jarvis Thomson's “Preferential Hiring” (Thomson 1973), and the philosophical literature on affirmative action burgeoned forth.
In contention was the nature of those “goals” and “timetables” imposed on every contractor by Revised Order No. 4. Weren't the “goals” tantamount to “quotas,” requiring institutions to use racial or gender preferences in their selection processes? Some answered “no” (Ezorsky 1977, 86). Properly understood, affirmative action did not require (or even permit) the use of gender or racial preferences. Others said “yes” (Goldman 1976, 182–3). Affirmative action, if it did not impose preferences outright, at least countenanced them. Among the yea-sayers, opinion divided between those who said preferences were morally permissible and those who said they were not. Within the “morally permissible” set, different writers put forward different justifications.
The essays by Thomson and Nagel defended the use of preferences but on different grounds. Thomson endorsed job preferences for women and African-Americans as a form of redress for their past exclusion from the academy and the workplace. Preferential policies, in her view, worked a kind of justice. Nagel, by contrast, argued that preferences might work a kind of social good, and without doing violence to justice. Institutions could for one or another good reason properly depart from standard meritocratic selection criteria because the whole system of tying economic reward to earned credentials was itself indefensible.
Justice and desert lay at the heart of subsequent arguments. Several writers took to task Thomson's argument that preferential hiring justifiably makes up for past wrongs. Preferential hiring seen as redress looks perverse, they contended, since it benefits individuals (African-Americans and women possessing good educational credentials) least likely harmed by past wrongs while it burdens individuals (younger white male applicants) least likely to be responsible for past wrongs (Simon 1974, 315–19; Sher 1975, 162; Sher 1979, 81–82; and Goldman 1976, 190–1). Instead of doing justice, contended the critics, preferential treatment violated rights. What rights were at issue? The right of an applicant “to equal consideration” (Thomson 1973, 377; Simon 1974, 312),the right of the maximally competent to an open position (Goldman 1976, 191; Goldman 1979, 24–8), or the right of everyone to equal opportunity (Gross 1977a, 382; Gross 1978, 97). Moreover, according to the critics, preferential treatment confounded desert by severing reward from a “person's character, talents, choices and abilities” (Simon 1979, 96), by “subordinating merit, conduct, and character to race” (Eastland and Bennett 1979, 144), and by disconnecting outcomes from actual liability and damage (Gross 1978, 125–42).
Defenders of preferences were no less quick to enlist justice and desert in their cause. Mary Anne Warren, for example, argued that in a context of entrenched gender discrimination, gender preferences might improve the “overall fairness” of job selections. Justice and individual desert need not be violated.
If individual men's careers are temporarily set back because of…[job preferences given to women], the odds are good that these same men will have benefited in the past and/or will benefit in the future—not necessarily in the job competition, but in some ways—from sexist discrimination against women. Conversely, if individual women receive apparently unearned bonuses [through preferential selection], it is highly likely that these same women will have suffered in the past and/or will suffer in the future from…sexist attitudes. (Warren 1977, 256)
Likewise, James Rachels defended racial preferences as devices to neutralize unearned advantages by whites. Given the pervasiveness of racial discrimination, it is likely, he argued, that the superior credentials offered by white applicants do not reflect their greater effort, desert, or even ability. Rather, the credentials reflect their mere luck at being born white. “Some white…[applicants] have better qualifications…only because they have not had to contend with the obstacles faced by their African-American competitors” (Rachels 1978, 162). Rachels was less confident than Warren that preferences worked uniformly accurate offsets. Reverse discrimination might do injustice to some whites; yet its absence would result in injustices to African-Americans who have been unfairly handicapped by their lesser advantages.
Rachels' diffidence was warranted in light of the counter-responses. If racial and gender preferences for jobs (or college admissions) were supposed to neutralize unfair competitive advantages, they needed to be calibrated to fit the variety of backgrounds aspirants brought to any competition for these goods. Simply giving blanket preferences to African-Americans or women seemed much too ham-handed an approach if the point was to micro-distribute opportunities fairly (Sher 1975, 165ff).
To many of its critics, reverse discrimination was simply incoherent. When “the employers and the schools favor women and blacks,” objected Lisa Newton, they commit the same injustice perpetrated by Jim Crow discrimination. “Just as the previous discrimination did, this reverse discrimination violates the public equality which defines citizenship” (Newton 1973, 310).
William Bennett and Terry Eastland likewise saw racial preferences as in some sense illogical:
To count by race, to use the means of numerical equality to achieve the end of moral equality, is counterproductive, for to count by race is to deny the end by virtue of the means. The means of race counting will not, cannot, issue in an end where race does not matter (Eastland and Bennett 1979, 149).
When Eastland and Bennett alluded to those who favored using race to get to a point where race doesn't count, they had in mind specifically the Supreme Court's Justice Blackmun who, in the famous 1978 Bakke case (discussed below), put his own views in just those simple terms. For Blackmun, the legitimacy of racial preferences was to be measured by how fast using them moves us toward a society where race doesn't matter (a view developed in subtle detail by the philosopher Richard Wasserstrom in Wasserstrom 1976). While the critics of preferences feigned to find the very idea of using race to end racism illogical and incoherent, they also fell back on principle to block Blackmun's instrumental defense should it actually prove both reasonable and plausible. “The moral issue comes in classic form,” wrote Carl Cohen. “Terribly important objectives…appear to require impermissible means.” Cohen asked, “might we not wink at the Constitution this once” and allow preferences to do their good work (Cohen 1995, 20)? Neither he nor other critics thought so. Principle must hold firm. “[I]n the distribution of benefits under the laws all racial classifications are invidious” (Cohen 1995, 52).
But what, exactly, is the principle—constitutional or moral—that always bars the use of race as a means to “terribly important objectives”? Alan Goldman did more than anyone in the early debate to formulate and ground a relevant principle. Using a contractualist framework, he surmised that rational contractors would choose a rule of justice requiring positions to be awarded by competence. They would choose this rule because it instantiates a principle of equal opportunity which in turn instantiates a broad right to equal consideration of interests, this last principle springing from the basic condition of the contracting parties as rational, self-interested, and equally situated choosers. On its face, the rule of competence would seem to preclude filling positions by reference to factors like race and gender that are unrelated to competence. However, Goldman's “rule” blocked preferences only under certain empirical conditions. Goldman explained the derivation of the rule and its consequent limit this way:
The rule for hiring the most competent was justified as part of a right to equal opportunity to succeed through socially productive effort, and on grounds of increased welfare for all members of society. Since it is justified in relation to a right to equal opportunity, and since the application of the rule may simply compound injustices when opportunities are unequal elsewhere in the system, the creation of more equal opportunities takes precedence when in conflict with the rule for awarding positions. Thus short-run violations of the rule are justified to create a more just distribution of benefits by applying the rule itself in future years. (Goldman 1979, 164–165).
In other words, if “terribly important objectives” having to do with equalizing opportunities in a system rife with inequality could in fact be furthered by measured and targeted reverse discrimination, justice wouldn't stand in the way. Goldman's principle did not have the adamantine character Cohen and other critics sought in a bar to preferences. Where can such an unyielding principle be found? I postpone further examination of this question until I discuss the Bakke case, below, whose split opinions constitute an extended debate on the meaning of constitutional equality.
The terms of the popular debate over racial and gender preferences often mirrored the arguments philosophers and other academics were making to each other. Preference's defenders offered many reasons to justify them, reasons having to do with compensatory or distributive justice, as well as reasons having to do with social utility (more African-Americans in the police department would enable it better to serve the community, more female professors in the classroom would inspire young women to greater achievements). Critics of preferences retorted by pointing to the law. And well they should, since the text of the Civil Rights Act of 1964 seemed a solid anchor even if general principle proved elusive. Title VI of the Act promised that “[n]o person…shall, on the ground of race, color, or national origin, be excluded from participation in, be denied the benefits of, or be subjected to discrimination under any program or activity receiving Federal financial assistance.” Title VII similarly prohibited all employment practices that discriminated on the basis of race, gender, religion, or national origin.
In face of the plain language of Titles VI and VII, how did preferential hiring and promotion ever arise in the first place? How could they be justified legally? Part of the answer lies in the meaning of “discrimination.” The Civil Rights Act did not define the term. The federal courts had to do that job themselves, and the cases before them drove the definition in a particular direction. Many factories and businesses prior to 1964, especially in the South, had in place facially discriminatory policies and rules. For example, a company's policy might have openly relegated African-Americans to the maintenance department and channeled whites into operations, sales, and management departments, where the pay and opportunities for advancement were far better. If, after passage of the Civil Rights Act, the company willingly abandoned its facially segregative policy, it could still carry forward the effects of its past segregation through other already-existing facially neutral rules. A company policy, say, that required workers to give up their seniority in one department if they transferred to another would have locked in place older African-American maintenance workers as effectively as the company's prior segregative rule that made them ineligible to transfer at all. Consequently, courts began striking down facially neutral rules that carried through the effects of an employer's past discrimination, regardless of the original intent or provenance of the rules. “Intent” was effectively decoupled from “discrimination.” In 1971, the Supreme Court ratified this process, giving the following construction of Title VII:
The objective of Congress in the enactment of Title VII…was to achieve equality of employment opportunities and remove barriers that have operated in the past to favor an identifiable group of white employees over other employees. Under the Act, practices, procedures, or tests neutral on their face, and even neutral in terms of intent, cannot be maintained if they operate to “freeze” the status quo of prior discriminatory employment practices.
What is required by Congress is the removal of artificial, arbitrary, and unnecessary barriers to employment when the barriers operate invidiously to exclude on the basis of racial or other impermissible classification.
In a few short paragraphs the Court advanced from proscribing practices that froze in place the effects of a firm's own past discrimination to proscribing practices that carried through the effects of past discrimination generally. The Court characterized statutory discrimination as any exclusionary practice not necessary to an institution's activities. Since many practices in most institutions were likely to be exclusionary, rejecting minorities and women in greater proportion than white men, all institutions needed to reassess the full range of their practices to look for, and correct, discriminatory effect. Against this backdrop, the generic idea of affirmative action took form:
Each institution should effectively monitor its practices for exclusionary effect and revise those that cannot be defended as “necessary” to doing business. In order to make its monitoring and revising effective, an institution ought to predict, as best it can, how many minorities and women it would select over time, were it successfully nondiscriminating. These predictions constitute the institution's affirmative action “goals,” and failure to meet the goals signals to the institution (and to the government) that it needs to revisit its efforts at eliminating exclusionary practices.There may still remain practices that ought to be modified or eliminated.
The point of such affirmative action: to induce change in institutions so that they could comply with the nondiscrimination mandate of the Civil Rights Act.
However, suppose this self-monitoring and revising fell short? In early litigation under the Civil Rights Act, courts concluded that some institutions, because of their past exclusionary histories and continuing failure to find qualified women or minorities, needed stronger medicine. Courts ordered these institutions to adopt “quotas,” to take in specific numbers of formerly excluded groups on the assumption that once these new workers were securely lodged in place, the institutions would adapt to this new reality.
Throughout the 1970s, courts and government enforcement agencies extended this idea across the board, requiring a wide range of firms and organizations—from AT&T to the Alabama Highway Patrol—temporarily to select by the numbers. In all these cases, the use of preferences was tied to a single purpose: to prevent ongoing and future discrimination. Courts carved out this justification for preferences not through caprice but through necessity. They found themselves confronted with a practical dilemma that Congress had never envisaged and thus never addressed when it wrote the Civil Rights Act. The dilemma was this: courts could impose racial preferences to change foot-dragging or inept defendants (and by doing so apparently transgress the plain prohibition in Title VII) or they could order less onerous steps they knew would be ineffective, thus letting discrimination continue (and by doing so violate their duty under Title VII). Reasonably enough, the federal courts resolved this dilemma by appeal to the broad purposes of the Civil Rights Act and justified racial preferences where needed to prevent ongoing and future discrimination.
Thus, preferential affirmative action in the workplace served the same rationale as the non-preferential sort. Its purpose was not to compensate for past wrongs, offset unfair advantage, appropriately reward the deserving, or yield a variety of social goods; its purpose was to change institutions so they could comply with the nondiscrimination mandate of the Civil Rights Act.
In the 1970s, while campuses were embroiled in debate about how to increase African-Americans and women on the faculty, universities were also putting into effect schemes to increase minority presence within the student body. Very selective universities, in particular, needed new initiatives because only a handful of African-American and Hispanic high school students possessed test scores and grades good enough to make them eligible for admission. These institutions faced a choice: retain their admissions criteria unchanged and live with the upshot—hardly any African-Americans and Hispanics on campus—or fiddle with their criteria to get a more substantial representation. Most elected the second path.
The Medical School of the University of California at Davis was typical. It reserved sixteen of the one hundred slots in its entering classes for minorities. In 1973 and again in 1974, Allan Bakke, a white applicant, was denied admission although his test scores and grades were better than most or all of those admitted through the special program. He sued. In 1977, his case, Regents of the University of California v. Bakke, reached the Supreme Court. The Court rendered its decision a year later (438 U.S. 265 ).
An attentive reader of Title VI of the Civil Rights Act might have thought this case was an easy call. So, too, thought four justices on the Supreme Court, who voted to order Bakke admitted to the Medical School. Led by Justice Stevens, they saw the racially segregated, two-track scheme at the Medical School (a recipient of federal funds) as a clear violation of the plain language of the Title.
Four other members of the Court, led by Justice Brennan, wanted very keenly to save the Medical School program. To find a more attractive terrain for doing battle, they made an end-run around Title VI, arguing that, whatever its language, it had no independent meaning itself. It meant in regard to race only what the Constitution meant. Thus, instead of having to parse the stingy and unyielding language of Title VI (“no person shall be subjected to…on the ground of race”), the Brennan group could turn their creative energies to interpreting the broad and vague language of the Fourteenth Amendment (“no person shall be denied the equal protection of the laws”), which provided much more wiggle-room for justifying racial preferences. The Brennan group persuaded one other member, Justice Powell, to join them in their view of Title VI. But Powell didn't agree with their view of the Constitution. He argued that the Medical School's policy was unconstitutional and voted that Bakke must be admitted. His vote, added to the four votes of the Stevens group, meant that Allan Bakke won his case and that Powell got to write the opinion of the Court. The Brennan strategy didn't reap the fruit it intended.
Against the leanings of the Brennan group, who would distinguish between “benign” and “malign” uses of race and deal more leniently with the former, Powell insisted that the Fourteenth Amendment's promise of “equal protection of the law” must mean the same thing for all, black and white alike. To paraphrase Powell:
The Constitution can tolerate no “two-class” theory of equal protection. There is no principled basis for deciding between classes that deserve special judicial attention and those that don't. To think otherwise would involve the Court in making all kinds of “political” decisions it is not competent to make. In expounding the Constitution, the Court's role is to discern “principles sufficiently absolute to give them roots throughout the community and continuity over significant periods of time, and to lift them above the pragmatic political judgments of a particular time and place” (Bakke, at 295–300 [Powell quoting Cox 1976, 114]).
What, then, was the practical meaning of a “sufficiently absolute” rendering of the principle of equal protection? It was this: when the decisions of state agents “touch upon an individual's race or ethnic background, he is entitled to a judicial determination that the burden he is asked to bear on that basis is precisely tailored to serve a compelling governmental interest (Bakke, at 300).
Powell, with this standard in hand, then turned to look at the four reasons the Medical School offered for its special program: (i) to reduce “the historic deficit of traditionally disfavored minorities in medical schools and the medical profession;” (ii) to counter “the effects of societal discrimination;” (iii) to increase “the number of physicians who will practice in communities currently underserved;” and (iv) to obtain “the educational benefits that flow from an ethnically diverse student body” (Bakke, at 307). Did any or all of them specify a compelling governmental interest? Did they necessitate use of racial preferences?
As to the first reason, Powell dismissed it out of hand.
If [the School's] purpose is to assure within its student body some specified percentage of a particular group merely because of its race or ethnic origin, such a preferential purpose must be rejected not as insubstantial but as facially invalid. Preferring members of any one group for no reason other than race or ethnic origin is discrimination for its own sake.
As to the second reason, Powell allowed it more force. A state has a legitimate interest in ameliorating the effects of past discrimination. Even so, contended Powell, the Court,
has never approved a classification that aids persons perceived as members of relatively victimized groups at the expense of other innocent individuals in the absence of judicial, legislative, or administrative findings of constitutional or statutory violations (Bakke, at 308).
And the Medical School does not purport to have made, and is in no position to make, such findings. Its broad mission is education, not the formulation of any legislative policy or the adjudication of particular claims of illegality.…[I]solated segments of our vast governmental structures are not competent to make those decisions, at least in the absence of legislative mandates and legislatively determined criteria (Bakke, at 309).
As to the third reason, Powell found it, too, insufficient. The Medical School provided no evidence that the best way it could contribute to increased medical services to underserved communities was to employ a racially preferential admissions scheme. Indeed, the Medical School provided no evidence that its scheme would result in any benefits at all to such communities (Bakke, at 311).
This left the fourth reason. Here Powell found merit. A university's interest in a diverse student body is legitimated by the First Amendment's implied protection of academic freedom. This constitutional halo makes the interest “compelling.” However, the Medical School's use of a racial and ethnic classification scheme was not “precisely tailored” to effect the School's interest in diversity, argued Powell.
The diversity that furthers a compelling state interest encompasses a far broader array of qualifications and characteristics of which racial or ethnic origin is but a single though important element. [The Medical School's] special admissions program, focused solely on ethnic diversity, would hinder rather than further attainment of genuine diversity (Bakke, at 316).
The diversity which provides an educational atmosphere “conducive to speculation, experiment and creation” includes a nearly endless range of experiences, talents, and attributes that students might bring to campus. In reducing diversity to racial and ethnic quotas, the Medical School wholly misconceived this important educational interest.
In sum, although the last of the Medical School's four reasons encompassed a “compelling governmental interest,” the School's special admissions program was not necessary to effect the interest. The special admissions program was unconstitutional. So concluded Justice Powell.
This was a conclusion Justice Brennan tried vigorously to forestall. Brennan agreed with Powell that “equal protection” must mean the same thing—that is, remain one rule—whether applied to blacks or whites. But the same rule applied to different circumstances need not yield the same results. Racial preferences created for different reasons and producing different outcomes need not all be judged in the same harsh, virtually fatal, manner. This point was the crux of Brennan's defense of the Medical School's policy.
Powell thought there was no principled way to distinguish “benign” from “malign” discrimination, but Brennan insisted there was. He argued that if the Court looked carefully at its past cases striking down Jim Crow laws, it would see the principle at work. What the Court found wrong in Jim Crow was that it served no purpose except to mark out and stigmatize one group of people as inferior. The “cardinal principle” operating in the Court's decisions condemned racial classifications “drawn on the presumption that one race is inferior to another” or that “put the weight of government behind racial hatred and separation” (Bakke, at 358 [Brennan, dissenting]). Brennan agreed with Powell that no public racial classification motivated by racial animus, no classification whose purpose is to stigmatize people with the “badge of inferiority,” could withstand judicial scrutiny. However, the Medical School's policy, even if ill-advised or mistaken, reflected a public purpose far different from that found in Jim Crow. The policy ought not be treated as though it were cut from the same cloth.
Brennan granted that if a state adopted a racial classification for the purpose of humiliating whites, or stigmatizing Allan Bakke as inferior and confining him to second-class citizenship, that classification would be as odious as Jim Crow. But the Medical School's policy had neither this purpose nor this effect. Allan Bakke may have been upset and resentful at losing out under the special plan, but he wasn't “in any sense stamped as an inferior by the Medical School's rejection of him.” Nor did his loss constitute a “pervasive injury,” in the sense that wherever he went he would be treated as a “second-class citizen” because of his color (Bakke, at 376 [Brennan, dissenting]).
In short, argued Brennan, the principle embedded in the Equal Protection Clause should be viewed as an anti-caste principle, a principle that uniformly and consistently rejects all public law whose purpose is to subject people to an inferior and degraded station in life, whether they are black or white. Of course, given the asymmetrical position of whites and blacks in our country, we are not likely to encounter laws that try to stigmatize whites as an inferior caste (much less succeed at it). But this merely shows that a principle applied to different circumstances produces different results. Because the Medical School's program sought to undo the effects of a racial caste system long-enduring in America, it represented a purpose of great social importance and should not be found Constitutionally infirm: so maintained Brennan (Bakke, at 363 [Brennan, dissenting]).
Justice Powell never successfully engaged this way of reading “constitutional equality.” His insistence on clear, plain, unitary, absolute principle did not cut against the Brennan view. The issue between Powell and Brennan was not the consistency and stringency of the principle but its content. If the Constitution says, “The state cannot deliberately burden someone by race if its purpose is to create or maintain caste,” then constitutional law doesn't block any of the Medical School's justifications.
If we turn away from exegesis of the Constitution, are we likely to find in political theory itself any principle of equality implying that every use of racial preferences in every circumstance works an intolerable injustice? There is reason to think not. To see why, consider John Rawls' theory of justice-as-fairness. For our purposes, what is striking about the theory is the division of labor it embraces. Its very broadest principles of liberty and equality are themselves unable to single out proper micro-allocations of social benefits and burdens. This is not a defect; this is their nature. What they can do is structure roles and institutions which then create the social and legal machinery for assigning benefits and burdens. Rawls' principles oblige a constitution to protect equality of citizenship but leaves most other matters to legislative judgment. Thus, law that in form and in fact makes some people “second-class citizens” would be unjust, clearly, but this limitation doesn't bar government from asking people to bear unequal burdens for the common good, not even unequal burdens premised on race or ethnicity. Nor does Rawls' principle of fair equality of opportunity block such burdens, either, for, while ordinarily discouraging selection based on race or ethnicity, it can itself be limited in the name of achieving greater equality of opportunity (the point noted by Goldman). To reformers in a society that has grievously failed to secure equal citizenship and fair equality of opportunity for most of its history, Rawls' principles of equality supply few guideposts.
Will looking farther afield yield an understanding of general equality adamantly inhospitable to every use of preferences? The prospects seem dim. As Georgia Warnke has argued (1998), any very general notion of equality can be employed as much to defend affirmative action (and the social inclusion it effects) as to condemn it (and the racial non-neutrality it involves). The challenge here is well-illustrated by Carl Cohen's most recent effort, in a debate with James Sterba, to extract a strict prohibition on racial preferences from the Aristotelian principle that “equals should be treated equally” (Cohen and Sterba 2003, 23). This principle, urges Cohen, “certainly entails at least this: It is wrong, always and everywhere, to give special advantage to any group simply on the basis of physical characteristics that have no relevance to the award given or the burden imposed” (Cohen and Sterba 2003, 25). Whether anything interesting follows from this proposition depends on how we construe “relevance.” Cohen admits that public policy may rightly treat some people differently because of their physical characteristics. For example, the state might offer special assistance to the old or disabled. As it happens, this example suggests that the “relevance” of physical differences is something independent of social policy. Age and disability it seems are real features of persons and public policy simply tracks them. However, the difference that differences make is not something itself given by nature; it is determined by public purposes. Age and disability are made “relevant” in this manner—in the one case, by the social purpose of assuring that people do not have to live in poverty when they can no longer work; in the other case, by the social purpose of assuring that people are not foreclosed from developing and marketing their talents by impediments in the (largely constructed) physical environment.
Purpose determines relevancy, and this is true whether or not the relevant differences are physical. For example, if the nation thinks the public interest is served by maintaining a domestic sugar industry through subsidies, then a Michigan farmer who grows sugar beets is relevantly different from his neighbor across the road who grows tomatoes. If the nation thinks a modest program of redistributing income is legitimate, then it uses a social security payout formula that gives disproportionate return to low wage-earners over high wage-earners. Similarly, if the nation thinks it desirable to change white institutions so that they are less uniformly white, that purpose links skin color to recruitment.
Because the Aristotelian principle by itself doesn't rule out racial preferences (since blacks and whites may be relevantly different with respect to certain legitimate public purposes), it is not surprising that Cohen also invokes a substantive conception of equality: “All members of humankind are equally ends in themselves, all have equal dignity—and therefore all are entitled to equal respect from the community and its laws” (Cohen and Sterba 2003, 24). This principle, however, brings us back to the interpretive questions about “equal protection of the laws” played out in the Powell-Brennan exchange in Bakke. By Justice Brennan's lights, Allen Bakke's basic dignity was not violated. The Medical School's two-track policy that resulted in Bakke's rejection did not, by intent or effect, stigmatize him as inferior, or mark him off as a member of a despised caste, or turn him into a second-class citizen. Bakke arguably had to bear a particular burden because of his race but the burden was not significantly different objectively from others that public policy might have thrown his way. If the Medical School had reserved sixteen of its seats for applicants from economically deprived backgrounds, no one would have suggested that it had violated the equal protection clause of the Fourteenth Amendment. Yet under this hypothetical policy Allan Bakke could have lost out as well—lost out to low-income applicants whose college grades and MCAT scores were inferior to his own. Allen Bakke may have felt aggrieved at losing out under the Medical School's policy of racial preferences, but it is not enough to show that those who lose out under some public scheme feel offended or disgruntled. Cohen needs to specify a conception of dignity in which bearing unequal burdens on behalf of urgent social ends invariably amounts to an assault on dignity if the burdens happen to be assigned by race. This specification remains unfinished in his work so far.
How, if it held the Medical School's policy unconstitutional, did Justice Powell's Bakke opinion become the basis upon which universities across the land enacted—or maintained—racially preferential admissions policies?
If Powell had concluded with his assessment of the Medical School's four justifications, Bakke would have left university affirmative action in a precarious situation. However, he didn't stop there. In an earlier ruling on Bakke's lawsuit, the California Supreme Court had forbidden the Medical School to make any use of race or ethnicity in its admissions decisions. Powell thought this went too far. Given higher education's protected interest in “diversity,” and given that a student's race or ethnicity might add to diversity just in the same way that her age, work experience, family background, special talents, foreign language fluency, athletic prowess, military service, and unusual accomplishments might, Powell vacated that portion of the California Supreme Court's order.
Then he added some dicta for guidance. If universities want to understand diversity and the role that race and ethnicity might play in achieving it, they should look to Harvard, proposed Powell, and he appended to his opinion a long statement of Harvard's diversity program. In such a program, Powell contended, racial or ethnic background might
be deemed a “plus” in a particular applicant's file, yet it does not insulate the individual from comparison with all other candidates for the available seats.…This kind of program treats each applicant as an individual in the admissions process. The applicant who loses out on the last available seat to another candidate receiving a “plus” on the basis of ethnic background will not have been foreclosed from all consideration for that seat simply because he was not the right color or had the wrong surname. It would mean only that his combined qualifications…did not outweigh those of the other applicant. His qualifications would have been weighed fairly and competitively, and he would have had no basis to complain of unequal treatment under the Fourteenth Amendment (Bakke, at 318, 319).
In these off-hand comments, universities saw a green light for pushing ahead aggressively with their affirmative action programs. Justice Powell's basic holding could not have been plainer: any system like the Medical School's that assessed applications along two different tracks defined by race or that used numerical racial quotas must fail constitutional muster. Yet by the mid-1980s universities across the land had in place systems of admissions and scholarships that exhibited one or both of these features. When the University of Maryland's Banneker scholarships—awarded only to African-American students—were held in violation of the Constitution in 1994, the house of cards forming university affirmative action began to fall. In 1996, the Court of Appeals for the Fifth Circuit struck down the University of Texas Law School's admissions program. In 1998, the Court of Appeals for the First Circuit struck down a Boston plan assigning students to selective high schools by race. In 2001, two more schools saw their admissions programs invalidated by federal courts: the University of Georgia and the University of Michigan Law School. In many of these cases, educational institutions were using schemes that made race something very much more than Justice Powell's “plus” factor. The Fifth Circuit Court's ruling in the University of Texas case (Hopwood v. Texas, 78 F 3d 932 [Fifth Circuit, 1996]) threw a cloud even over this small window for affirmative action, boldly asserting that the Bakke holding was now dead as law and that race could not be used at all in admissions.
Given Justice Powell's singular opinion, supported by no one else on the Court, and given the drift of Supreme Court decisions on racial preferences since 1978, the Hopwood court was not outlandish, if a bit presumptuous, in declaring Powell's holding in Bakke dead. As it happened, Powell's opinion was far from dead. In the University of Michigan Law School case, Grutter v. Bollinger, eventually decided by the Supreme Court in June 2003, Justice Sandra Day O'Connor's lead opinion declared: “today we endorse Justice Powell's view that student body diversity is a compelling state interest that can justify the use of race in university admissions” (Grutter v. Bollinger, 539 U.S. 306 , at 330). Diversity was alive after all. But how it worked its affirmative action elixir remained as unclear in 2003 as it had been in 1978.
To see why, consider how in Grutter Justice O'Connor posed the issue:
The [Law School's] policy aspires to “achieve that diversity which has the potential to enrich everyone's education and thus make a law class stronger than the sum of its parts.” […] The policy does not restrict the types of diversity contributions eligible for substantial weight in the admissions process, but instead recognizes “many possible bases for diversity admissions.” […] The policy does, however, reaffirm the Law School's longstanding commitment to “one particular type of diversity,” that is, “racial and ethnic diversity with special reference to the inclusion of students from groups which have been historically discriminated against” (Grutter, at 325).
Now, posing the issue this way and allowing the Law School to assert a special interest in “one particular type of diversity” invites the conflation of general diversity—a diversity of opinions, experiences, backgrounds, talents, aspirations, and perspectives—with ethnic and racial diversity that Justice Powell appeared strongly to resist. After all, the Medical School too had asserted in its defense a similar special interest.
Diversity is many things insisted Powell; it cannot be reduced to one thing. But why not? This question—and Justice O'Connor's acquiescence in the Law School's way of framing its affirmative action goal—spotlights a crucial gap in Powell's Bakke opinion. Diversity is many things—so many things, in fact, that institutions will think it worthwhile to concentrate on some diversity factors rather than others. One college may emphasize admitting foreign students; another may make its mission to educate poor students; a third may specialize in getting science students who have shown unusual promise in high school. If colleges have a legally protected interest in choosing a diverse student body, why don't they have a legally protected interest in deciding which part of the diversity spectrum to single out for special attention? If they can single out a part of the spectrum, why can't they use a simple device like set-asides to effect their purpose?
Recall Justice Powell's principal objection to the Medical School's set-asides. In making the race or ethnicity of an applicant a “plus,” as in the Harvard Plan, an admissions scheme does
not insulate the individual from comparison with all other candidates for the available seats. The file of a particular African-American applicant may be examined for his potential contribution to diversity without the factor of race being decisive when compared, for example, with that of an applicant identified as an Italian-American if the latter is thought to exhibit qualities more likely to promote beneficial educational pluralism.…In short, an admissions program operated in this way is flexible enough to consider all pertinent elements of diversity in light of the particular qualifications of each applicant…. This kind of program treats each applicant as an individual in the admissions process (Bakke, at 318–19).
By contrast, Allan Bakke was not able to compete for all one hundred seats at the Medical School; sixteen were reserved for candidates not like him.
It is Powell's resistance to this reservation that underpins Justice O'Connor's opinion in Grutter, where she observed:
We find that the Law School's admissions program bears the hallmark of a narrowly tailored plan. As Justice Powell made clear in Bakke, truly individualized consideration demands that race be used in a flexible, non-mechanical way. It follows from this mandate that universities cannot establish quotas for members of certain racial groups (Grutter, at 337).
What vindicated the Law School in O'Connor's eyes was its “highly individualized, holistic review of each applicant's file, giving serious consideration to all the ways an applicant might contribute to a diverse educational environment” (Grutter, at 339). This “individualized consideration” is crucial; in Gratz v. Bollinger, decided the same day as Grutter, Justice O'Connor switched sides to hold unconstitutional the undergraduate admissions process at the University of Michigan. The undergraduate admissions office operated differently than the Law School. It computed an index score for each applicant by assigning numerical points for academic factors such as high school grades, admissions test scores, quality of high school, strength of curriculum; and for nonacademic factors such as being a resident of Michigan, a child of an alumnus, a recruited athlete, or a member of “an underrepresented minority group.” An applicant falling in this last category automatically received 20 points (Gratz v. Bollinger, 539 U. S. 244 , at 287). In O'Connor's view, this “mechanical” procedure meant that the undergraduate admissions office did not fully take account in each application “of all factors that may contribute to student body diversity (Gratz, at 288).
But O'Connor's conclusion here simply draws us back to the lacuna in Justice Powell's Bakke opinion. Why should the undergraduate admissions office take account of all the factors that may contribute to student body diversity if it especially wants to select from certain parts of the diversity spectrum? Why can't it, like the Law School, claim a special interest in “one particular type of diversity”? Why bar the undergraduate admissions office from using an effective tool to promote its interest even if the tool is “mechanical”? In fact, the Law School's “non-mechanical” procedure differed from the undergraduate admissions policy only on its face, not in its results. During admissions season, the Law School's director of admissions frequently consulted the “daily reports” that “kept track of the racial and ethnic composition” of the incoming class. He did so to make sure a “critical mass” of minority students was included (Grutter, at 326). In short, the Law School “managed” its admissions process so that roughly 6 to 7 percent of each entering class was African-American. The undergraduate admissions procedure, with its index scores, yielded a similar outcome (Grutter, at 367–69 [Rehnquist, dissenting] and 374 [Kennedy, dissenting]). Only surface appearance distinguished the two procedures. Justice Scalia called the Law School's “holistic” admissions process “a sham,” and not without reason (Grutter, at 375 [Scalia, dissenting]).
In any case, the Law School's affirmative action program was vindicated by the Supreme Court and “diversity” securely established as its basis. Nevertheless, diversity hardly seems the right basis. When the University of Michigan was first challenged in federal court it insisted that it had a compelling educational interest in achieving racial and ethnic diversity and put into evidence findings by one of its psychology professors, Patricia Gurin, showing that
students learn better in a diverse educational environment, and they are better prepared to become active participants in our pluralistic, democratic society once they leave such a setting.…[S]tudents who experienced the most racial and ethnic diversity in classroom settings and in informal interactions with peers showed the greatest engagement in active thinking processes, growth in intellectual engagement and motivation, and growth in intellectual and academic skills (Gratz v Bollinger, 122 F. Supp. 2d 811 , at 823).
But suppose Patricia Gurin's findings had turned out differently. Can we imagine that the University would have abandoned affirmative action?
In fact, the main reason the University of Michigan strives for a reasonable representation of minorities on campus is because of the way it conceives of its mission: to prepare Michigan's future leaders.
The argument is straightforward:
- The leadership of the state ought roughly to represent the state's population, ethnically and racially.
- As the state's premier training ground for leadership, the University ought to graduate rising generations of future leaders that conform to this representational goal.
- To graduate such rising generations, it needs to admit racially and ethnically representative classes.
This is the “Michigan Mandate” (Gratz v. Bollinger, 135 F. Supp. 2d 790 , at 796–797). Racial and ethnic diversity aren't incidental contributors to a distinct academic mission; they are part of the mission of the University, just as educating young people from Michigan is part of it.
This “integration” rationale seems much more aligned with the actual practice of university affirmative action than the diversity rationale. Indeed, in the midst of her nominally Powell-like defense of the Law School, Justice O'Connor for a moment veered away from the “educational benefits of diversity” to go down a quite different path. Institutions like the University of Michigan and its Law School, she noted, “represent the training ground for…our Nation's leaders.” She went on:
In order to cultivate a set of leaders with legitimacy in the eyes of the citizenry, it is necessary that the path to leadership be visibly open to talented and qualified individuals of every race and ethnicity. All members of our heterogeneous society must have confidence in the openness and integrity of the educational institutions that provide this training.…Access…. must be inclusive…of every race and ethnicity, so that all members of our heterogeneous society may participate in the educational institutions that provide the training and education necessary to succeed in America (Grutter, at 336).
This “legitimacy” argument—not in any way about enriching the climate of opinion on campus—parallels the simple syllogism set out just above. It provides an oblique way of justifying the second premise. Justice O'Connor inserted this new rationale into the middle of her Grutter opinion—inserted it unexpectedly and then abandoned it just as quickly to resume tracing the byways of diversity.
Certainly, something in the spirit of the “Michigan Mandate” has animated the elite universities studied by William Bowen and Derek Bok in The Shape of the River: Long-Term Consequences of Considering Race in College and University Admissions. The primary aim of these institutions is not through vigorous affirmative action to enhance the liberal learning of their students (although they welcome this gain for all students). Their main motive for assuring that the percentage of African-Americans and Hispanics on their campuses is more than token derives from their self-conceptions as institutions training individuals who will some day take up national and international leadership roles in the professions, arts, sciences, education, politics, and government (Bowen and Bok 1998, 7). Society, they believe, will be stronger and more just if the ranks of its leading citizens include a racially and ethnically broader range of people than it does now (and than it did twenty-five years ago).
Three recent works have developed versions of the integration argument. In a long article, “Integration, Affirmative Action, and Strict Scrutiny,” published just before the Supreme Court's decisions in Grutter and Gratz, Elizabeth Anderson argues that an integration rationale is superior to the diversity rationale not only on its merits but as a plausible rending of what “compelling state interest”—the legal standard employed by the Supreme Court in racial classification cases—really demands. She concludes:
Current affirmative action debates have lost sight of the ideal of integration as a compelling moral and political goal. Unless disadvantaged racial groups are integrated into mainstream social institutions, they will continue to suffer from segregation and discrimination. But the loss is not only theirs. It is a loss suffered by the American public at large in its failure fully to realize civil society—extensive social spaces in which citizens from all origins exchange ideas and cooperate on terms of equality—which is an indispensable social condition of democracy itself. It is high time that institutions of higher education—the most ardent practitioners of integration today—forthrightly defend this ideal in its own right, and that the Supreme Court recognize integration as a compelling interest legitimately addressed through race-conscious means. (Anderson 2002, 1270–71)
Anderson has developed her thesis more elaborately in her recent book, The Imperative of Integration (Anderson 2010).
Robert Fullinwider and Judith Lichtenberg, in their 2004 book, Leveling the Playing Field: Justice, Politics, and College Admissions, present an integration argument for affirmative action centered around the little syllogism above (Fullinwider and Lichtenberg 2004, 165–188). A state like Michigan has strong reasons for wanting its leaders of commercial, financial, legal, cultural, and educational institutions to reflect to some practical degree the racial and ethnic variety of its population. One of the reasons is offered by Justice O'Connor: the very legitimacy of state institutions comes under a cloud if important segments of the population—long excluded from participating at the highest levels—remain on the outside looking in. Another reason is emphasized by Elizabeth Anderson: democratic governance draws nurture from inclusion rather than exclusion. If the leaders who frame the political agenda and shape public opinion remain uniformly white, the common good gets shortchanged; it isn't really common. Finally, racial and ethnic comity are harder to achieve when whites see a black or brown face in a position of leadership or power as a novelty rather than a commonplace. Thus, if states like Michigan have strong reasons for creating an integrated stratum of leaders, they have strong reasons for making sure that the universities that feed this stratum are themselves integrated.
Lastly, Lesley Jacobs, in Pursuing Equal Opportunities (2004), sees affirmative action as a means of overcoming the structural exclusion of African-Americans from major institutions: affirmative action assists structural integration, and structural integration serves the ideal of equal opportunity (Jacobs 2004, 124–142).
The integration argument, like the diversity argument, is straightforwardly instrumental. It points to hoped-for outcomes of affirmative action. If those outcomes don't materialize, then affirmative action's cause is weakened. Moreover, the little integration syllogism isn't complete as it stands. It needs to include another premise: that the gains from achieving racially and ethnically integrated classes don't come at a disproportionate cost.
Perhaps the cost is high, or even too high. Stephan and Abigail Thernstrom certainly think so. They contend that most of the cost falls on the very persons affirmative action is supposed to benefit. Under-prepared African-Americans are thrown into academic environments where they cannot succeed (Thernstrom and Thernstrom 1997, 395–411). In the Thernstrom's view, race-blind admissions policies will result in a desirable “cascading,” with African-American and Hispanic students ending up at colleges and universities where the academic credentials of their fellow students match their own. However, the Bowen and Bok study provides some evidence that cascading isn't necessarily a valuable phenomenon. In fact, at the schools they studied, the better the institution a student entered, whatever his academic credentials, the more likely he was to graduate, go on to further education, and earn a good income (Bowen and Bok 1998, 63, 114, 144).
Even so, the select schools Bowen and Bok studied may be quite unrepresentative of the full range of colleges and universities that resort to racial preferences and the cost-benefit picture that holds for these schools may not hold for the rest. Indeed, the picture drawn by Richard Sander in a lengthy review of affirmative action in law schools, published in the November 2004 Stanford Law Review, lends credence to the Thernstrom's academic mismatch thesis. Ranking law schools from best to worst, Sander found that affirmative action boosts African-American students 20 or more steps up the ladder, putting them in schools with white classmates who possess considerably better LSAT scores and undergraduate college grades. The upshot: “close to half of black students end up in the bottom tenth of their classes.” This bad performance yields three bad consequences. First, African-American students suffer high attrition rates. Second, they fail the bar exam at a high rate (the principal predictor of a student's passing or failing is her grades, not the quality of her school). Third, they suffer a significant employment penalty for low grades “in all schools outside the top ten.” Sander estimates that under a race-blind admissions system, American law schools would actually create more African-American lawyers than they do under affirmative action (Sander 2004, 449, 460, 478, 479).
Sander's article inspired a flurry of responses disputing his methodology and conclusions (e.g., Ayers and Brooks 2005, Chambers, et al. 2005, Wilkins 2005, Ho 2005, Barnes 2007, and Rothstein and Yoon 2008). Sander replied to his critics (Sander 2005); other writers found evidence of mismatch effects in educational domains outside law schools (Elliott et al. 1996, Smith and McArdle, 2004, Arcidiacono et al. 2012); yet other scholars presented independent confirmation of Sander's hypothesis (Arcidiacono et al. 2011b, Williams 2013); one critic, upon re-analysis, had to withdraw her refutation of Sander (Barnes 2007, Barnes 2011); and in 2012 Sander joined with co-author Stuart Taylor to publish Mismatch, a book-length treatment setting out old and new research supporting Sander's hypothesis.
One reason disputes persist about cause and effect is paucity of data. Sander was able to launch his study of mismatch in law schools because the Law School Admissions Council had undertaken a study in the 1990s tracking 27,000 law students from matriculation to bar passage. Likewise, Bowen and Bok were able to access a vast store of information about students and colleges collected by the Mellon Foundation. The Bowen and Bok information remained “in–house,” not available to all researchers. The Sander information dwelt just on law students and only within a narrow time-frame. Much of the back–and–forth about the effects of affirmative action could be resolved if educational institutions disclosed information about their admissions processes, student grades, graduation rates, and the like. But institutional resistance makes this unlikely.
In 2004, after the Supreme Court's Grutter decision, the University of Texas revised its admissions policy to include race as one input to an applicant's Personal Achievement Index which, combined with her Academic Index, qualifies her, or not, for admission. Prior to 2004, the University's admissions procedure had been governed by the Hopwood decision of the Fifth Circuit Court of Appeals, which barred the University from considering race; and by the Top Ten Percent policy created by the Texas legislature soon after the Hopwood decision. The University had broadened the considerations making up the Personal Achievement Index in order to improve minority admissions but saw Grutter as opening a way for a more direct and effective approach. In 2008, Abigail Fisher, an unsuccessful applicant to the University, sued. As her case proceeded toward the Supreme Court, her plea, among other things, asked the Court to overturn Grutter. Instead, by a 7–1 vote in June, 2013, the Court left the Grutter framework in place but sent the case back to the lower courts, arguing that they had been too deferential in accepting the University's argument that using race was “necessary” to achieving a “critical mass” of minority students on campus (Fisher v. Texas, 133 S. Ct. 2411 , at 2417–2422).
The affirmative action debate throws up many ironies but one in particular should be noted. From the time in 1973 when Judith Jarvis Thomson conjectured that it was “not entirely inappropriate” that white males bear the costs of the community's “making amends” to African-Americans and women through preferential affirmative action, the affirmative action debate has been distracted by intense quarrels over who deserves what. Do the beneficiaries of affirmative action deserve their benefits (Allen 2011)? Do the losers deserve their loss?
Christopher Edley, the White House assistant put in charge of President Clinton's review of affirmative action policy in 1994–95, speaks of how, during the long sessions he and his co-workers put in around the conference table, the discussion of affirmative action kept circling back to the “coal miner's son” question.
Imagine a college admissions committee trying to decide between the white [son] of an Appalachian coal miner's family and the African American son of a successful Pittsburgh neurosurgeon. Why should the black applicant get preference over the white applicant? (Edley 1996, 132ff)
Why, indeed? This is a hard question if one defends affirmative action in terms of compensatory or distributive justice. If directly doing justice is what affirmative action is about, then its mechanisms must be adjusted as best they can to reward individual desert and true merit. The “coal miner's son” example is meant to throw desert in the defender's face: here is affirmative action at work thwarting desert, for surely the coal miner's son—from the hard scrabble of Harlan County, say—has lived with far less advantage than the neurosurgeon's son who, we may suppose, has reaped all the advantages of his father's (or mother's) standing. Why should the latter get a preference?
A defender might answer in the way that Charles Lawrence and Mari Matsuda do in their 1997 book, We Won't Go Back: “All the talk about class, the endless citings of the ‘poor white male from Appalachia,’ cannot avoid the reality of race and gender privilege” (Lawrence and Matsuda 1997, 190–191). White privilege means that racial preferences really do balance the scales. Male privilege means that gender preferences really do make selections fairer. There must be no concession: in every case the loser in affirmative action is not the more deserving.
Even Justice Brennan tried his hand at this argument, writing in Bakke:
If it was reasonable to conclude—as we hold that it was—that the failure of minorities to qualify for admission at [the University of California at] Davis [Medical School] under regular procedures was due principally to the effects of past discrimination, then there is a reasonable likelihood that, but for pervasive racial discrimination,…[Bakke] would have failed to qualify for admission even in the absence of Davis' special admissions program (Bakke, at 365–6 [Brennen, dissenting].
Bakke was not denied anything to which he had moral claim in the first place.
Just as Mary Anne Warren and James Rachels in the 1970s thought that the losers under affirmative action were losing only illicit privileges, and the gainers merely gaining what should have been theirs to start with, so Michel Rosenfeld in the 1990s, in his extended “dialogic” defense of affirmative action, echoes the same thought:
Although affirmative action treats innocent white males unequally, it need not deprive them of any genuine equal opportunity rights. Provided an affirmative action plan is precisely tailored to redress the losses in prospects of success [by African-Americans and women] attributable to racism and sexism, it only deprives innocent white males of the corresponding undeserved increases in their prospects of success…. [R]emedial affirmative action does not take away from innocent white males anything that they have rightfully earned or that they should be entitled to keep (Rosenfeld 1991, 307–8, emphasis added).
However, programs that give blanket preferences by race or gender are hardly “precisely tailored” to match desert and reward since, as Lawrence and Matsuda themselves acknowledge at one place, the white male “privilege” is “statistical” (Lawrence and Matsuda 1997, 252). Yet it is individuals, not statistical averages, who gain or lose in admissions determinations and employment selections.
The persistence of this strategy of defense reflects a residual feeling that the fruits of affirmative action are somehow spoiled if they are not deserved (Harris 2003). Nevertheless, it is the wrong strategy for defending real world affirmative action. The programs legitimated under the Civil Rights Act, in both their nonpreferential and preferential forms, had—and have—a clear aim: to change institutions so that they can meet the nondiscrimination mandate of the Act. Selection by race or gender was—and is—a means to such change. To the extent that such selection also compensates individuals for past wrongs or puts people in places they really deserve, these are incidental by-products of a process aimed at something else.
The same is true with university admissions policy. When the Medical School of the University of California at Davis offered four reasons in defense of the special admissions program that left Bakke on the outside, none of these reasons said anything about matching admissions and desert. The criteria of the special admissions program—race and ethnicity—were instruments to further ends: integrating the classroom, the profession, and the delivery of medical services, and breaking the chain of self-reproducing societal discrimination. Likewise, when the University of Michigan and the University of Texas defended their programs they pointed not to desert rewarded but educational value generated.
Now, if the neurosurgeon's son because of his race can advance each of these goals and the coal miner's son, because of his race, cannot, then isn't the selection decision easy? Pick the African-American neurosurgeon's son (however advantaged he may be) over the white coal miner's son (even if he is the most deserving creature imaginable). The aims of real world affirmative action make race and ethnicity (and sometimes gender) salient, not personal desert or merit. The test of real world affirmative action lies in the urgency of its ends (preventing discrimination, promoting diversity or integration) and the aptness (moral and causal) of its means (racial, ethnic, and gender preferences). Both remain much in dispute.
- Allen, Anita L., 1990–1991, “On Being a Role Model,” Berkeley Journal of Gender, Law and Justice (formerly Berkeley Women's Law Journal), 6: 22–42.
- –––, 2011, “Was I Entitled or Should I Apologize? Affirmative Action Going Forward,” Journal of Ethics, 15 (September): 253–263.
- Alon, Sigal and Marta Tienda, 2005, “Assessing the Mismatch Hypothesis: Differences in College Graduation Rates by Institutional Selectivity,” Sociology of Education, 78 (October): 294–315.
- Anderson, Elizabeth S., 2002, “Integration, Affirmative Action, and Strict Scrutiny,” New York University Law Review, 77 (November): 1195–1271.
- –––, 2004, “Racial Integration as a Compelling Interest,” Constitutional Commentary, 21 (Spring): 15–40.
- –––, 2010, The Imperative of Integration, Princeton, New Jersey: Princeton University Press.
- Appiah, Kwame Anthony, 2011, “Group Rights and Racial Affirmative Action,” Journal of Ethics, 15 (September): 265–280.
- ––– and Amy Gutmann, 1996, Color Conscious: The Political Morality of Race, Princeton, New Jersey: Princeton University Press.
- Arcidiacono, Peter et al., 2011a, “Representation versus Assimilation: How Do Preferences in College Admissions Affect Social Interaction?” Journal of Public Economics, 95 (February): 1–15.
- –––, 2011b, “Does Affirmative Action Lead to Mismatch? A New Test and Evidence,” Quantitative Economics, 2 (November): 303–333.
- –––, 2012, “What Happens After Enrollment? An Analysis of the Time Path of Racial Differences in GPA and Major Choice,” IZA Journal of Labor Economics, 1 (October).
- Arnold, N. Scott, 1998, “Affirmative Action and the Demands of Justice,” Social Philosophy and Policy, 15 (Summer): 133–175.
- Astin, Alexander W. and Dongbin Kim, 2004, “Cross-Racial Interaction Among Undergraduates: Some Consequences, Causes, and Patterns,” Research in Higher Education, 45 (August): 529–554.
- Ayers, Ian and Richard Brooks, 2005, “Does Affirmative Action Reduce the Number of Black Lawyers?” Stanford Law Review, 57 (May): 1807–1854.
- Barnes, Katherine Y., 2007, “Is Affirmative Action Responsible for the Achievement Gap Between Black and White Law Students?” Northwestern University Law Review, 101 (Fall): 1759–1808.
- –––, 2011, “Is Affirmative Action Responsible for the Achievement Gap Between Black and White Law Students? A Correction, a Lesson and an Update,” Northwestern University Law Review, 101 (Spring): 791–812.
- Beauchamp, Tom L., 1998, “In Defense of Affirmative Action,” Journal of Ethics, 2: 143–158.
- Beckwith, Francis J. and Todd E. Jones (eds.), 1997, Affirmative Action: Social Justice or Reverse Discrimination? Amherst, New York: Prometheus Books.
- –––, 1999, “The ‘No One Deserves His or Her Talents’ Argument for Affirmative Action: A Critical Analysis,” Social Theory and Practice, 25 (Spring): 53–60.
- Bell, Derrick, 2003, “Diversity's Distractions,” Columbia Law Review, 103 (October): 1622–1633.
- Bergmann, Barbara R., 1996, In Defense of Affirmative Action. New York: Basic Books.
- Black, Virginia, 1974. “The Erosion of Legal Principles in the Creation of Legal Policies,” Ethics, 84 (January): 93–115.
- Boonin, David, 2011, Should Race Matter? Unusual Answers to the Usual Questions, New York: Cambridge University Press.
- Bowen, Dierdre M., 2010, “Brilliant Disguise: An Empirical Study of a Social Experiment Banning Affirmative Action,” Indiana Law Journal, 85 (Fall): 1197–1254.
- Bowen, William G. and Derek Bok, 1998. The Shape of the River: Long-Term Consequences of Considering Race in College and University Admissions, Princeton, New Jersey: Princeton University Press.
- Boxill, Bernard, 1972, “The Morality of Reparation,” Social Theory and Practice, 2 (Spring): 113–123.
- –––, 1978, “The Morality of Preferential Hiring,” Philosophy & Public Affairs, 7 (Spring): 246–268.
- –––, 1984, Blacks and Social Justice, Totowa, New Jersey: Rowman and Allanheld; revised edition, Lanham, Maryland: Rowman & Littlefield, 1992.
- –––, 2010, “Discrimination, Affirmative Action, and Diversity in Business,” in George G. Brenkert and Tom L. Beauchamp (eds.), The Oxford Handbook of Business Ethics,Oxford: Oxford University Press, pp.535–562.
- ––– and Jan Boxill, 2003, “Affirmative Action” in R. G. Frey (ed), A Companion to Applied Ethics, Malden, Massachusetts: Blackwell Publishing, pp. 118–127.
- Boylan, Michael, 2002, “Affirmative Action: Strategies for the Future,” Journal of Social Philosophy, 33 (Spring): 117–130.
- Brown, Kevin, 2010, “Perspective and Point of View on Affirmative Action,” Indiana Law Journal, 85 (Fall): 1301–1313.
- Burns, Prue and Jan Schapper, 2008, “The Ethical Case for Affirmative Action,” Journal of Business Ethics, 83 (December): 369–379.
- Cahn, Steven M. (ed.), 1993, Affirmative Action and the University: A Philosophical Inquiry, Philadelphia: Temple University Press.
- ––– (ed.), 1995, The Affirmative Action Debate, New York: Routledge. [Contains main articles from the 1970s.]
- Capaldi, Nicholas, 1985, Out of Order: Affirmative Action and the Crisis of Doctrinaire Liberalism, Buffalo, New York: Prometheus Books.
- –––, 1998, “The Liberal Paradigm in Affirmative Action Law,” Loyola Law Review, 43 (Winter): 525–568.
- Card, Robert F., 2005, “Making Sense of the Diversity–Based Legal Argument for Affirmative Action,” Public Affairs Quarterly, 19 (January): 11–24.
- Carnevale, Anthony P. and Stephen J. Rose, 2003, Socioeconomic Status, Race/Ethnicity, and Selective College Admissions, New York: The Century Foundation.
- Carter, Stephen L., 1991, Reflections of an Affirmative Action Baby, New York: Basic Books.
- Chambers, David L., Timothy T. Clydesdale, William Kidder, and Richard O. Lempert, 2005, “The Real Impact of Eliminating Affirmative Action in American Law Schools: An Empirical Critique of Richard Sander's Study,” Stanford Law Review, 57 (May): 1855–1898.
- Chang, Mitchell J. et al. (eds.), 2003, Compelling Interest: Examining the Evidence on Racial Dynamics in Colleges and Universities, Stanford, California: Stanford University Press.
- Clarke, Simon, 2006, “The Case for Affirmative Action,“ The Philosopher's Magazine, Issue 33 (First Quarter): 73–77.
- Cohen, Carl, 1995, Naked Racial Preference, Lanham, Maryland: Madison Books.
- –––, 1998, “The Corruption That is Group Preference,” Academic Questions, 11 (Summer): 14–22.
- –––, 2007, “The Michigan Civil Rights Initiative and the Civil Rights Act of 1964,” Michigan Law Review First Impressions, 105: 117–122. [available online]
- ––– and James Sterba, 2003. Affirmative
Action and Racial Preferences: A Debate, New York: Oxford
University Press. Reviewed by:
- Beauchamp, T. L., 2006, “Affirmative Action and Racial Preference: A Debate,” Mind, 115 (July): 747–750.
- Ball, Stephen W., 2005, “Affirmative Action and Racial Preference: A Debate, ” Ethics, 116 (October): 226–228.
- Kershnar, Stephen, 2004, “Review of Carl Cohen, James Sterba, Affirmative Action and Racial Preference,” Notre Dame Philosophical Reviews, July 6. [available online]
- Cohen, Marshall et al. (eds.), 1977, Equality and Preferential Treatment, Princeton, New Jersey: Princeton University Press. [Contains the early articles in Philosophy & Public Affairs.]
- Cokorinos, Lee, 2003, The Assault on Diversity:An Organized Challenge to Racial and Gender Justice, Lanham, Maryland: Rowman & Littlefield.
- Corlett, J. Angelo, 1993, “Racism and Affirmative Action,” Journal of Social Philosophy, 24 (Spring): 163–175.
- –––, 2003, Race, Racism, and Reparations, Ithaca, New York: Cornell University Press.
- Cowan, J. L., 1972, “Inverse Discrimination,” Analysis, 33 (October): 10–12.
- Cox, Archibald, 1976, The Role of the Supreme Court in American Government, New York: Oxford University Press.
- Crenshaw, Kimberle W., 2007, “Framing Affirmative Action,” Michigan Law Review First Impressions, 105: 123–133. [available online]
- Curry, George E. (ed.), 1996, The Affirmative Action Debate, Reading, Massachusetts: Addison-Wesley Publishing Company.
- Davis, Michael, 1981. “Racial Quotas, Weights, and Real Possibilities,” Social Theory and Practice, 7 (Spring): 49–84.
- Delgado, Richard, 2007, “Rodrigo's Riposte: The Mismatch Theory of Law School Admissions,” Syracuse Law Review, 57 (3): 637–656.
- DeVille, Kenneth and Loretta M. Kopelman, 2003, “Diversity, Trust, and Patient Care: Affirmative Action in Medical Education 25 Years after Bakke,” Journal of Medicine and Philosophy, 28 (August): 489–516.
- Dixon, Jeffrey C. and Michael S. Rosenbaum, 2004, “Nice to Know You? Testing Contact, Cultural, and Group Threat Theories of Anti-Black and Anti-Hispanic Stereotypes,” Social Science Quarterly, 85 (June): 257–284
- Dombrowski, Daniel, 2002, “Moral Individualism and Affirmative Action,” Professional Ethics, 10 (1): 39–60.
- Dreyfuss, Joel and Charles Lawrence III, 1979, The Bakke Case: The Politics of Inequality, New York: Harcourt Brace Jovanovich.
- Durlauf, Steven N., 2008, “Affirmative Action, Meritocracy, and Efficiency,” Politics, Philosophy and Economics, 7 (May): 131–158.
- Dworkin, Ronald, 1985, A Matter of Principle, Cambridge, Massachusetts: Harvard University Press.
- –––, 1998, “Is Affirmative Action Doomed?” New York Review of Books, 45 (November 5): 56–60.
- Eastland, Terry, 1996, Ending Affirmative Action: The Case for Colorblind Justice, New York: Basic Books.
- ––– and William J. Bennett, 1979, Counting By Race: Equality from the Founding Fathers to Bakke and Weber, New York: Basic Books.
- Edley, Christopher, Jr., 1996, Not All Black and White: Affirmative Action and American Values, New York: Hill and Wang.
- Elliott, Rogers et al., 1996, “The Role of Ethnicity in Choosing and Leaving Science in Highly Selective Institutions,” Research in Higher Education, 37 (December): 681–709.
- Epstein, Richard A., 2002, “A Rational Basis for Affirmative Action: A Shaky but Classical Liberal Defense,” Michigan Law Review, 100 (August): 2036–2061.
- Erler, Edward J., 1997, “The Future of Civil Rights: Affirmative Action Redivivus,” Notre Dame Journal of Law, Ethics and Public Policy, 11: 15–65.
- Edwards, John, 1995, When Race Counts: The Morality of Racial Preference in Britain and America, London: Routledge.
- Ezorsky, Gertrude, 1991, Racism and Justice: The Case for Affirmative Action, Ithaca, New York: Cornell University Press.
- –––, 1977, “Hiring Women Faculty,” Philosophy & Public Affairs, 7 (Autumn): 82–91.
- Feinberg, Walter, 1998, On Higher Ground: Education and the Case for Affirmative Action, New York: Teachers College Press.
- –––, 2003, “Affirmative Action,” in Hugh LaFollette (ed.), The Oxford Handbook of Practical Ethics, Oxford: Oxford University Press, pp. 272–299.
- Fiscus, Ronald J., 1992, The Constitutional Logic of Affirmative Action, Durham, North Carolina: Duke University Press.
- Fiss, Owen, 1976, “Groups and the Equal Protection Clause,” Philosophy & Public Affairs, 5 (Winter): 107–177.
- Forde-Mazrui, Kim, 2004, “Taking Conservatives Seriously: A Moral Justification for Affirmative Action and Reparations,” California Law Review, 92 (May): 683–753.
- Fullinwider, Robert K., 1975, “Preferential Hiring and Compensation,” Social Theory and Practice, (Spring): 307–320.
- –––, 1980, The Reverse Discrimination Controversy: A Moral and Legal Analysis, Totowa, New Jersey: Rowman and Littlefield.
- –––, 1986a, “Reverse Discrimination and Equal Opportunity,” in Joseph P. DeMarco and Richard M. Fox (eds), New Directions in Ethics: The Challenge of Applied Ethics, New York: Routledge & Kegan Paul, pp. 173–189.
- –––, 1986b, “Achieving Equal Opportunity,” in Fullinwider and Mills (eds.), 99–114.
- –––, 1994, “Indefensible Defenses of Affirmative Action,” in M. N. S. Sellers (ed.), An Ethical Education: Community and Morality in the Multicultural University, Oxford: Berg Publishers, pp. 233–242.
- –––, 1997, “The Life and Death of Racial Preferences,” Philosophical Studies, 85 (March): 163–180.
- –––, 2002, “Diversity and Affirmative Action,” in Verna V. Gehring and William A. Galston (eds.), Philosophical Dimensions of Public Policy, New Brunswick, New Jersey: Transaction Publishers, pp. 115–124.
- ––– and Claudia Mills, eds.), 1986, The Moral Foundations of Civil Rights, Totowa, New Jersey: Rowman & Littlefield.
- ––– and Judith Lichtenberg, 2004, Leveling the Playing Field: Justice, Politics, and College Admissions, Lanham, Maryland: Rowman & Littlefield.
- Gahringer, Robert E., 1979, “Race and Class: The Basic Issue of the Bakke Case,” Ethics, 90 (October): 97–114.
- Ghassemian, Andrew J. III, 2003, “Compensatory Justice in Affirmative Action,” Current Surgery, 60 (November): 596–597.
- Gitlin, Adam, 2007, “What the MCRI Can Teach White Litigants about White Dominance,” Michigan Law Review First Impressions, 105: 134–138. [available online]
- Glazer, Nathan, 1975, Affirmative Discrimination: Ethnic Inequality and Public Policy, New York: Basic Books.
- –––, 1998, “For Racial Dispensation in Admissions,” Academic Questions, 11 (Summer): 22–32.
- Goldman, Alan, 1975, “Reparations to Individuals or Groups?” Analysis, 35 (April): 168–170.
- –––, 1976, “Affirmative Action,” Philosophy & Public Affairs, 5 (Winter): 178–195.
- –––, 1979, Justice and Reverse Discrimination, Princeton, New Jersey: Princeton University Press.
- Graham, Hugh Davis, 1990, The Civil Rights Era: Origins and Development of National Policy 1960–1972, New York: Oxford University Press.
- Greenawalt, Kent, 1983, Discrimination and Reverse Discrimination, New York: Alfred A. Knopf.
- Gross, Barry R., 1978, Discrimination in Reverse: Is Turnabout Fair Play? New York: New York University Press.
- –––, (ed.), 1977a. Reverse Discrimination, Buffalo, New York: Prometheus Books.
- –––, 1977b, “Is Turn About Fair Play?” in Gross (ed.), 379–408.
- Guenin, Louis M., 1997, “Affirmative Action in Higher Education as Redistribution,” Public Affairs Quarterly, 11 (April): 117–140.
- Guinier, Lani and Susan Sturm, 2001, Who's Qualified? Boston: Beacon Press.
- Gurin, Patricia, Eric L. Day, Sylvia Hurtado, and Gerald Gurin, 2002, “Diversity and Higher Education: Theory and Impact on Educational Outcomes,” Harvard Educational Review, 72 (Fall): 330–337.
- –––, Brian A. Nagda, and Gretchin E. Lopez, (2004), “The Benefits of Diversity in Education for Democratic Citizenship,” Journal of Social Issues, 60 (March): 17–34.
- Gutmann, Amy and Dennis Thompson, 1996, Democracy and Disagreement, Cambridge, Massachusetts: Harvard University Press.
- Hajdin, Mane, 2002, “Affirmative Action, Old and New,” Journal of Social Philosophy, 33 (Spring): 83–96.
- Hansson, Sven Ove, 2004, “What are Opportunities and Why Should They Be Equal?” Social Choice & Welfare, 22 (April): 305–317.
- Harris, Luke C., 2003, “Contesting the Ambivalence and Hostility to Affirmative Action within the Black Community,” in Tommy L. Lott (ed.), A Companion to African-American Philosophy, Malden, Massachusetts: Blackwell Publishing, pp. 324–332.
- ––– and Uma Narayan, 1994, “Affirmative Action and the Myth of Preferential: A Transformative Critique of the Terms of the Affirmative Action Debate,” Harvard Journal of Ethnic and Racial Justice (formerly Harvard Blackletter Law Journal), 11: 1–35.
- Haslett, D. W., 2002, “Workplace Discrimination, Good Cause, and Color Blindness,” Journal of Value Inquiry, 36: 73–88.
- Hasnas, John, 2002, “Equal Opportunity, Affirmative Action, and the Anti-Discrimination Principle: The Philosophical Basis for the Legal Prohibition of Discrimination,” Fordham Law Review, 71 (November): 423–542.
- Heilman, Madeline E., 1997, “Sex Discrimination and the Affirmative Action Remedy: The Role of Sex Stereotypes,” Journal of Business Ethics, 16 (June): 877–889.
- Hess, Ryan C., 2007, “A Sheep in Wolf's Clothing: The Michigan Civil Rights Initiative as the Savior of Affirmative Action,” Michigan Law Review Firsts Impressions, 105: 139–143. [available online]
- Hill, Thomas E., 1991, “The Message of Affirmative Action,” Social Philosophy and Policy, 8 (Spring): 108–129.
- Himma, Kenneth Einar, 2001, “Discrimination and Disidentification: The Fair-Start Defense of Affirmative Action,” Journal of Business Ethics, 30 (April): 277–289.
- –––, 2002, “Desert, Entitlement, and Affirmative Action: A Response to Francis Beckwith,” Social Theory and Practice, 28 (January): 157–166.
- Ho, Daniel E., 2005, “Why Affirmative Action Does Not Cause Black Students to Fail the Bar: A Reply to Sander,” Yale Law Journal, 114 (June): 1997–2004.
- Ibarra, Robert A., 2001, Beyond Affirmative Action: Reframing the Context of Higher Education, Madison, Wisconsin: University of Wisconsin Press.
- Jacobs, Lesley A., 2004, Pursuing Equal Opportunities: The Theory and Practice of Egalitarian Justice, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
- Jaggar, Alison, 1997, “Gender, Race, and Difference: Individual Consideration versus Group-Based Affirmative Action in Admission to Higher Education,” Southern Journal of Philosophy, 35 (Spring): 21–51.
- Johnson, Kevin R.and Angela Onwuachi–Willig, 2005, “Cry Me a River: The Limits of A Systemic Analysis of Affirmative Action in American Law Schools,” African-American Law and Policy Report, 7 (1): 1–29.
- Johnson, Susan M. and Xia Li Lollar, 2002, “Diversity Policy in Higher Education: The Impact of College Students' Exposure to Diversity on Cultural Awareness and Political Participation,” Journal of Education Policy, 17 (June): 305–321.
- Kahlenberg, Richard D., 1996, The Remedy: Class, Race, and Affirmative Action, New York: Basic Books.
- –––,(ed.) 2010, Rewarding Strivers: Helping Low–Income Students Succeed in College, New York: Century Foundation.
- –––, 2012, A Better Affirmative Action: State Universities That Created Alternatives to Racial Preferences, New York: The Century Foundation.
- Kershnar, Stephen, 1997, “Strong Affirmative Action at State Institutions Cannot Be Justified Via Compensatory Justice,” Public Affairs Quarterly, 11 (October): 345–363.
- –––, 1999, “Uncertain Damages to Racial Minorities and Strong Affirmative Action,” Public Affairs Quarterly, 13 (January): 83–98.
- –––, 1999, “Strong Affirmative Action Programs and Disproportionate Burdens,” Journal of Value Inquiry, 33 (June): 201–209.
- –––, 2004, “Why Equal Opportunity is Not a Valuable Goal,” Journal of Applied Philosophy, 21 (August): 159–173.
- Ketchum, Sara Ann and Christine Pierce, 1976, “Implicit Racism,” Analysis, 36 (January): 91–95.
- Klor de Alva, Jorge, 1996, “Is Affirmative Action a Christian Heresy?” Representations, 55 (Summer): 59–73.
- Kocis, Robert A., 2010, “Discriminatory Privileges, Compensatory Privileges, and Affirmative Action,” in Christi Favor et al.(eds.), Essays in Philosophy, Politics, and Economics, Stanford, California: Stanford University Press, 139–156.
- Koppelman, Andrew and Donald Rebstock, 2007, “On Affirmative Action and Truly Individualized Consideration,” Northwestern University Law Review, 101 (Spring): 1469–1481.
- Kull, Andrew, 1992, The Color Blind Constitution, Cambridge, Massachusetts: Harvard University Press.
- Landau, Iddo, 1997, “Are You Entitled to Affirmative Action?” International Journal of Applied Philosophy, 11 (Winter-Spring): 17–22.
- Lawrence, Charles R. III, 2001, “Two Views of the River: A Critique of the Liberal Defense of Affirmative Action,” Columbia Law Review, 101 (May): 928–976.
- ––– and Mari J. Matsuda, 1997, We Won't Go Back: Making the Case for Affirmative Action, Boston: Houghton Mifflin Company.
- Leach, Bryan W., 2004, “Race as Mission Critical: The Occupational Need Rationale in Military Affirmative Action and Beyond,” Yale Law Journal, 113 (March): 1093–1143.
- LeFevre, Joseph, 2003, “The Value of Diversity: A Justification of Affirmative Action,” Journal of Social Philosophy, 34 (March): 125–133.
- Libertella, Anthony F., Sebastian A. Sora, and Samuel M. Natale, 2007, “Affirmative Action Policy and Changing Views,” Journal of Business Ethics, 74 (August): 65–71.
- Lichtenberg, Judith and David Luban, 2002, “The Merits of Merit,” in Verna V. Gehring and William A. Galston (eds). Philosophical Dimensions of Public Policy, New Brunswick, New Jersey: Transaction Publishers, pp. 101–113.
- Lindgren, J. Ralph, 1981, “The Irrelevance of Philosophical Treatments of Affirmative Action,” Social Theory and Practice, 7 (Spring): 1–19.
- Lippert–Rasmussen, Kasper, 2008, “Discrimination and the Aim of Proportional Representation,” Philosophy, Politics and Economics, 7 (May): 159–182.
- Lukes, Timothy J., and Bonnie G. Campodonico, 1996, “Merit Badgering: Dissecting a Slippery Concept in the Affirmative Action Debate,” Public Affairs Quarterly, 10 (July): 219–227.
- Malamud, Deborah C., 1997, “Assessing Class–Based Affirmative Action,” Journal of Legal Education, 47 (4): 452–471.
- –––, 2011, “Class Privilege in Legal Education: A Response to Sander,” Denver University Law Review, 88 (4): 729–750.
- Massey, Stephen J., 1981, “Rethinking Affirmative Action,” Social Theory and Practice, 7 (Spring): 21–47.
- McHugh, Peter, 2005, “Shared Being, Old Promises, and the Just Necessity of Affirmative Action,” Human Studies, 28 (2): 129–156.
- Mills, Nicolaus (ed.), 1994, Debating Affirmative Action: Race, Gender, Ethnicity, and the Politics of Inclusion, New York: Dell Publishing.
- Mosley, Albert G., 1998, “Policies of Straw or Policies of Inclusion? A Review of Pojman's ‘Case against Affirmative Action’,” International Journal of Applied Philosophy, 12 (Fall): 161–168.
- ––– and Nicholas Capaldi, 1996, Affirmative Action: Social Justice or Unfair Preference? Lanham, Maryland: Rowman and Littlefield.
- Murray, Dale, 2005, “The Affirmative Action Debate,” Teaching Philosophy, 28 (June): 284–287.
- Nagel, Thomas, 1973, “Equal Treatment and Compensatory Discrimination,” Philosophy & Public Affairs, 2 (Summer): 348–363.
- Newton, Lisa, 1973, “Reverse Discrimination as Unjustified,” Ethics, 83 (July): 308–312.
- Nickel, James W., 1972, “Discrimination and Morally Relevant Characteristics,” Analysis, 32 (March): 113–114.
- –––, 1974, “Should Reparations Be to Individuals or Groups?” Analysis, 34 (April): 154–160.
- Nieli, Russell (ed.), 1991, Racial Preference and Racial Justice: The New Affirmative Action Controversy, Washington, D.C.: Ethics and Public Policy Center.
- –––, 2012, Wounds That Will Not Heal: Affirmative Action and Our Continuing Racial Divide, New York: Encounter Books.
- Nunn, William A., 1974, “Reverse Discrimination,” Analysis, 34 (April): 151–154.
- O'Neil, Robert M., 1975, Discriminating Against Discrimination: Preferential Admissions and the DeFunisCase, Bloomington, Indiana: Indiana University Press.
- Orfield, Gary with Michael Kurlaender (eds.), 2001. Diversity Challenged: Evidence on the Impact of Affirmative Action, Cambridge, Massachusetts: Harvard Education Publishing Group.
- Orlans, Harold June O'Neill (eds.), 1992, Affirmative Action Revisited, Newbury Park, California: Sage.
- Owen, Matthew S. and Danielle S. Barbour, 2007, “Disparate Impact and the Use of Racial Proxies in Post–MCRI Admissions,” Michigan Law Review First Impressions, 105: 144–148. [available online]
- Paul, Ellen Frankel et al. (eds.), 1991, Reassessing Civil Rights, Oxford: Blackwell Publishers.
- Pell, Terence J., 2003, “What's the Big Deal about Racial Preferences?” Journal of Social Philosophy, 34 (Summer): 326–329.
- –––, 2004, “The Nature of Claims about Race and the Debate over Racial Preferences” International Journal of Applied Philosophy, 18 (1): 13–26.
- Pidot, Justin, 2006, “Intuition or Proof: The Social Science Justification for the Diversity Rationale in Grutter v. Bollinger and Gratz v. Bollinger,” Stanford Law Review, 59 (December): 761–808.
- Pojman, Louis, 1992, “The Moral Status of Affirmative Action,” Public Affairs Quarterly, 6 (April): 181–206.
- –––, 1998, “The Case against Affirmative Action,” International Journal of Applied Philosophy, 12 (Spring): 97–115.
- –––, 1998, “Straw Man or Straw Theory? A Reply to Albert Mosley,” International Journal of Applied Philosophy, 12 (Fall): 169–180.
- Purdy, Laura, 1994. “Why Do We Need Affirmative Action?” Journal of Social Philosophy, 25 (Spring): 133–143.
- Rachels, James, 1978, “What People Deserve,” in John Arthur and William Shaw (eds.), Justice and Economic Distribution, Englewood Cliffs, New Jersey: Prentice-Hall, 150–163.
- Radin, Margaret Jane, 1991, “Affirmative Action Rhetoric,” Social Philosophy and Policy, 8 (Spring): 130–149.
- Rawls, John, 1971, A Theory of Justice, Cambridge, Massachusetts: Harvard University Press.
- –––, 2001, Justice as Fairness: A Restatement, Cambridge, Massachusetts: Harvard University Press.
- Reynolds, William Bradford, 1984, “Individualism vs. Group Rights: The Legacy of Brown,” Yale Law Journal, 93 (May): 995–1005.
- Rosenfeld, Michel, 1991, Affirmative Action and Justice: A Philosophical and Constitutional Inquiry, New Haven, Connecticut: Yale University Press.
- Rothman, Stanley, S. M. Lipset, and Neil Nevitte, 2002, “Diversity and Affirmative Action: The State of Campus Opinion,” Academic Questions, 15 (Fall): 52–67.
- –––, 2003, “Racial Diversity Reconsidered,” Public Interest, 151 (Spring): 25–38.
- Rothstein, Jesse and Albert H. Yoon, 2008, “Affirmative Action in Law School Admissions: What Do Racial Preferences Do?” University of Chicago Law Review, 75 (Spring): 649–714.
- Rush, Sharon, 1994, “Understanding Affirmative Action: One Feminist's Perspective,” in M. N. S. Sellers (ed.). An Ethical Education: Community and Morality in the Multicultural University, Oxford: Berg Publishers, pp. 195–132.
- Sabbagh, Daniel, 2007, Equality and Transparency: A Strategic Perspective on Affirmative Action in American Law, New York: Palgrave Macmillan.
- Sandalow, Terrance, 1999, “Identity and Equality: Minority Preferences Reconsidered,” Michigan Law Review, 97 (May): 1874–1916.
- Sandel, Michael J., 2009, Justice: What's the Right Thing to Do? New York: Farrar, Strauss and Giroux.
- Sander, Richard H., 1997, “Experimenting with Class–Based Affirmative Action,” Journal of Legal Education, 47 (4): 472–503.
- –––, 2004, “A Systemic Analysis of Affirmative Action in American Law Schools,” Stanford Law Review, 57 (November): 367–484.
- –––, 2005, “A Reply to Critics,” Stanford Law Review, 57 (May): 1963–2016.
- –––, 2011, “Class in American Legal Education,” Denver University Law Review, 88 (4): 631–682.
- ––– and Stuart Taylor, Jr., 2012, Mismatch: How Affirmative Action Hurts Students It's Intended to Help, and Why Universities Won't Admit It, Philadelphia: Basic Books.
- Sartorelli, Joseph J., 1994, “Ruse on Gay Rights and Affirmative Action,” Analysis, 54 (April): 84–91.
- –––, 1997, “The Nature of Affirmative Action, Anti-Gay Oppression, and the Alleviation of Enduring Harm,” International Journal of Applied Philosophy, 11 (Winter-Spring): 23-3.
- Schmidt, Peter, 2008, “Scholars Mount Sweeping Effort to Measure Affirmative Action in Higher Education,” Chronicle of Higher Education, 54 (January 19): A19.
- Sher, George, 1975, “Justifying Reverse Discrimination in Employment,” Philosophy & Public Affairs, 4 (Winter): 159–170.
- –––, 1979, “Reverse Discrimination, the Future, and the Past,” Ethics, 90 (October): 81–87.
- –––, 1997, Approximate Justice: Studies in Non-Ideal Theory, Lanham, Maryland: Rowman & Littlefield.
- Shiner, Roger, 1973, “Individuals, Groups and Inverse Discrimination,” Analysis, 33 (June): 185–187.
- Silvestri, Philip, 1973, “The Justification of Inverse Discrimination,” Analysis, 34 (October): 31.
- Simon, Robert L., 1974, “Preferential Hiring: A Reply to Judith Jarvis Thomson,” Philosophy & Public Affairs, 3 (Spring): 312–320.
- –––, 1978, “Statistical Justification of Discrimination,” Analysis, 38 (January): 37–42.
- –––, 1979, “Individual Rights and ‘Benign’ Discrimination,” Ethics, 90 (October): 88–97.
- Skrentny, John David, 1996, The Ironies of Affirmative Action: Politics, Culture, and Justice in America, Chicago: University of Chicago Press.
- ––– (ed.), 2001, Color Lines: Affirmative Action, Immigration, and Civil Rights Options for America, Chicago: University of Chicago Press.
- Smyth, Frederick L. and John J. McArdle, 2004, “Ethnic and Gender Differences in Science Graduation at Selective Colleges with Implications for Admission Policy and College Choice,” Research in Higher Education, 45 (June): 353–381.
- Sowell, Thomas, 2004, Affirmative Action Around the World: An Empirical Study, New Haven, Connecticut: Yale University Press. [Reviewed by Carl Cohen in Commentary, 117 (April 2004): 73–76, and by Bernard Boxill in Ethics & International Affairs, 18 (2004): 114–115).]
- Stark, Susan, 2004, “Taking Responsibility for Oppression: Affirmative Action and Racial Injustice,” Public Affairs Quarterly, 18 (July): 205–221.
- Sterba, James P., 2003, “Defending Affirmative Action, Defending Preferences,” Journal of Social Philosophy, 34 (June): 285–300.
- –––, 2004, “The Michigan Cases and Furthering the Justification of Affirmative Action,” International Journal of Applied Philosophy, 18 (1): 1–12.
- –––, 2009, Affirmative Action for the Future, Ithaca, New York: Cornell University Press.
- –––, 2011, “Responses to Allen, Appiah, and Lawson,” Journal of Ethics, 15 (September): 291–306.
- Strasser, Mark, 2010, “On Disguises, Tokens, and Affirmative Action Policies,” Indiana Law Journal, 85 (Fall): 1293–1301.
- Stroud, Sarah, 1999, “The Aim of Affirmative Action,” Social Theory and Practice, 25 (Fall): 385–408.
- Stroup, Timothy, 1982, “Affirmative Action and the Police,” International Journal of Applied Philosophy, 1 (Fall): 1–19.
- Sturm, Susan and Lani Guinier, 1996, “The Future of Affirmative Action: Reclaiming an Innovative Ideal,” California Law Review, 84 (July): 953–1036.
- Symposium, 1979, “Bakke—Civil Rights Perspectives,” Harvard Civil Rights-Civil Liberties Law Review, 14 (Spring).
- Symposium, 1996a, “Race-Based Remedies,” California Law Review, 84 (July).
- Symposium, 1996b, “The Meanings of Merit—Affirmative Action and the California Civil Rights Initiative, ” Hastings Constitutional Law Quarterly, 23 (Summer).
- Tam, Mo Yin S. and Gilbert W. Bassett, Jr., 2004, “Does Diversity Matter? Measuring the Impact of High School Diversity on Freshman GPA,” Policy Studies Journal, 32: 129–144.
- Taylor, Paul, 1973, “Reverse Discrimination and Compensatory Justice,” Analysis, 33 (June): 177–182.
- Thernstrom, Stephan and Abigail Thernstrom, 1997, America in Black and White: One Nation, Indivisible, New York: Simon and Schuster.
- –––, 1999, “Reflections on The Shape of the River,” UCLA Law Review, 46 (June): 1583–1631.
- Thomson, Judith Jarvis, 1973, “Preferential Hiring,” Philosophy & Public Affairs, 2 (Summer): 364–384.
- Tushnet, Mark, 1991, “Change and Continuity in the Concept of Civil Rights: Thurgood Marshall and Affirmative Action,” Social Philosophy and Policy, 8 (Spring): 150–171.
- U. S. Commission on Civil Rights, 2007, Affirmative Action in American Law Schools, Washington, DC.
- Valls, Andrew, 1999, “The Libertarian Case for Affirmative Action,” Social Theory and Practice, 25 (Summer): 299–323.
- Van Laar, Colette, Shana Levin, and Stacey Sinclair, 2008, “Social Identity and Personal Identity Stereotype Threat: The Case of Affirmative Action,” Basic and Applied Social Psychology, 30 (4): 295-–310.
- Van Patten, Jim, 1995, “Affirmative Action: Retrospect and Prospect,” Contemporary Philosophy, 17 (November-December): 2-7.
- Van Roojen, Mark, 1997, “Affirmative Action, Non-Consequentialism, and Responsibility for the Effects of Past Discrimination,” Public Affairs Quarterly, 11 (July): 281–301.
- Waldron, Jeremy, 1998, “Humility and the Curse of Injustice,” in Robert Post and Michael Rogin (eds.). Race and Representation: Affirmative Action, New York: Zone Books, pp. 385–389.
- Warnke, Georgia, 1998, “Affirmative Action, Neutrality, and Integration,” Journal of Social Philosophy, 29 (Winter): 87–103.
- Warren, Mary Anne, 1977, “Secondary Sexism and Quota Hiring,” Philosophy & Public Affairs, 6 (Spring): 240–261.
- Wasserstrom, Richard, 1976, “Racism, Sexism, and Preferential Treatment: An Approach to the Topics,” UCLA Law Review, 24 (February): 581–622.
- Wilkins, David B., 2005, “A Systematic Response to Systematic Disadvantage? A Response to Sander,” Stanford Law Review, 57 (May): 1915–1961.
- Williams, Doug, 2013, “Do Racial Preferences Affect Minority Learning in Law Schools?” Journal of Empirical Legal Studies, 10 (June): 171–195.
- –––, Richard H. Sander, Marc Luppino, and Roger Bolus, 2011, “Revisiting Law School Mismatch: A Comment on Barnes (2007, 2011),” Northwestern University Law Review, 105 (2): 813–828.
- Williams, Reginald, 2005, “Affirmative Action, the “May the Best Person Win” Intuition, and Mill's The Subjection of Women,” Public Affairs Quarterly, 19 (January): 65–80.
- Wise, Tim, 2005, Affirmative Action: Racial Preference in Black and White, New York: Routledge.
- Wolf-Devine, Celia, 1988, “An Inequity in Affirmative Action,” Journal of Applied Philosophy, 5 (March): 107–108.
- –––, 1997, Diversity and Community in the Academy: Affirmative Action in Faculty Appointments, Lanham, Maryland: Rowman & Littlefield.
- Woodruff, Paul, 1976, “What's Wrong with Discrimination?” Analysis, 36 (March): 158–160.
- Yates, Steven, 1994, Civil Wrongs: What Went Wrong with Affirmative Action, San Francisco: Institute for Contemporary Studies.
- Young, Iris Marion, 1990, Justice and the Politics of Difference, Princeton, New Jersey: Princeton University Press.
How to cite this entry. Preview the PDF version of this entry at the Friends of the SEP Society. Look up this entry topic at the Indiana Philosophy Ontology Project (InPhO). Enhanced bibliography for this entry at PhilPapers, with links to its database.
- United States Commission on Civil Rights
- American Association for Affirmative Action, a national not-for-profit association of professionals working in the areas of affirmative action, equal opportunity, and diversity.
- Center for Individual Rights, a conservative public interest law firm, founded by Michael McDonald and Michael Greve.
- Diversity Web, an interactive resource hub for higher education, run by the Association of American Colleges and Universities.
- Civilrights.org, founded by the Leadership Conference on Civil Rights.
- American Civil Rights Institute, founded by Ward Connerly.
- Race, Gender, and Affirmative Action, an annotated bibliography of resources on race, gender, and affirmative action, maintained by Elizabeth S. Anderson (University of Michigan).