Embodied Cognition

First published Mon Jul 25, 2011

Cognition is embodied when it is deeply dependent upon features of the physical body of an agent, that is, when aspects of the agent's body beyond the brain play a significant causal or physically constitutive role in cognitive processing.

In general, dominant views in the philosophy of mind and cognitive science have considered the body as peripheral to understanding the nature of mind and cognition. Proponents of embodied cognitive science view this as a serious mistake. Sometimes the nature of the dependence of cognition on the body is quite unexpected, and suggests new ways of conceptualizing and exploring the mechanics of cognitive processing.

Embodied cognitive science encompasses a loose-knit family of research programs in the cognitive sciences that often share a commitment to critiquing and even replacing traditional approaches to cognition and cognitive processing. Empirical research on embodied cognition has exploded in the past 10 years. As the bibliography for this article attests, the various bodies of work that will be discussed represent a serious alternative to the investigation of cognitive phenomena.

Relatively recent work on the embodiment of cognition provides much food for thought for empirically-informed philosophers of mind. This is in part because of the rich range of phenomena that embodied cognitive science has studied. But it is also in part because those phenomena are often thought to challenge dominant views of the mind, such as the computational and representational theories of mind, at the heart of traditional cognitive science. And they have sometimes been taken to undermine standard positions in the philosophy of mind, such as the idea that the mind is identical to, or even realized in, the brain.


1. Embodied vs Traditional Cognitive Science

Consider four evocative examples of phenomena that have motivated embodied cognitive science.

  1. We typically gesture when we speak to one another, and gesturing facilitates not just communication but language processing itself (McNeill 1992).
  2. Vision is often action-guiding, and bodily movement and the feedback it generates are more tightly integrated into at least some visual processing than has been anticipated by traditional models of vision (O'Regan and Noë 2001).
  3. There are neurons, mirror neurons, that fire not only when we undertake an action, but do so when we observe others undertaking the same actions (Rizolatti and Craighero 2004).
  4. We are often able to perform cognitive tasks, such as remembering, more effectively by using our bodies and even parts of our surrounding environments to off-load storage and simplify the nature of the cognitive processing (Donald 1991).

Although phenomena such as (1)–(4) motivate embodied cognitive science, appealing to such phenomena to arrive at more substantive conclusions that have been drawn—for example, that traditional cognitive science is deeply flawed, or that dominant positions in the philosophy of mind, such as functionalism, are mistaken—requires further philosophical argument. Because the requisite argumentation typically appeals to other concepts central to work in empirically-informed philosophy of mind and cognitive science itself, such as modularity and nativism, debate over embodied cognition has become a hot topic in cognitive science in recent years (Adams 2010; Aizawa 2007; Chemero 2009; Shapiro 2011).

Traditional cognitive science has certainly conceptualized central cognitive processing, what we will call cognition in the narrow sense, in abstraction from bodily mechanisms of sensory processing and motor control. Research programs within artificial intelligence exemplify this view of cognition in the narrow sense, and they have been one of the clearest targets of embodied cognitive science. More positively, embodied cognitive science aims to understand the full range of perceptual, cognitive, and motor capacities we possess, cognition in the broad sense, as capacities that are dependent upon features of the physical body. In this article, we consider cognition construed both narrowly and broadly, in these senses.

Finally by way of introducing embodied cognitive science, we note its relationship to situated cognition (Smith 1999, Robbins and Aydede 2009). As a paradigm within situated cognition, embodied cognitive science can be distinguished from both the study of embedded cognition and the thesis of extended cognition.

Embodied cognitive science appeals to the idea that cognition deeply depends on aspects of the agent's body other than the brain. Without the involvement of the body in both sensing and acting, thoughts would be empty, and mental affairs would not exhibit the characteristics and properties they do. Work on embedded cognition, by contrast, draws on the view that cognition deeply depends on the natural and social environment. By focusing on the strategies organisms use to off-load cognitive processing onto the environment, this work places particular emphasis on the ways in which cognitive activity is distributed across the agent and her physical, social, and cultural environment (Suchman 1987, Hutchins 1995). The thesis of extended cognition is the claim that cognitive systems themselves extend beyond the boundary of the individual organism. On this view, features of an agent's physical, social, and cultural environment can do more than distribute cognitive processing: they may well partially constitute that agent's cognitive system. (Clark and Chalmers 1998, R. Wilson 2004; A. Clark 2008, Menary 2010).

We follow recent authors (A. Clark 2008; Rupert 2009b; Shapiro 2010, 2011) in holding that while embodied cognitive science can be neatly distinguished, in principle, from both of these other forms of situated cognition, and that there are times when this is useful (even crucial), the broader philosophical issues in play are also revealingly discussed sometimes by considering these views together. Thus, although this article focuses on the specific ways in which cognition depends on the physical body, it also discusses situated cognition more generally, as appropriate.

2. Some Historical Anchors for Embodied Cognitive Science

A consideration (Sections 2.1–2.3) of three landmark publications provides a historical anchor for understanding early work on embodied cognition in the narrow sense: George Lakoff and Mark Johnson's Metaphors We Live By (1980), the enactive perspective on cognition developed by Francisco Varela, Evan Thompson, and Eleanor Rosch in their The Embodied Mind (1991); and work on robotics and computationally intelligent action summarized and analyzed in Andy Clark's Being There: Putting Mind, World, and Body Back Together (1997). We then turn more briefly to influential work on embodied cognition in the broad sense (Sections 2.4–2.5) and on the phenomenological tradition within continental philosophy that has inspired more recent embodied cognitive science (Section 2.6).

2.1 Metaphor and Cognition

Figurative language clearly plays a role in cognition, and philosophers, linguists, and psychologists have all contributed to its understanding in cognitive science (Black 1962; Ortony 1979). Beginning in their Metaphors We Live By (1980), George Lakoff and Mark Johnson argued that such language, and metaphor in particular, was not simply a phenomenon to be studied in the domain of cognition, but actively structures much of cognition traditionally thought to be isolated from metaphor. For example, many central cognitive processes, such as those concerning space and time, were, claimed Lakoff and Johnson, both expressed and influenced by metaphor (hence “metaphors we live by”). If human experience is intricately bound up with large-scale metaphors, and both experience and metaphor are shaped up by the kinds of bodies we have that mediate between agent and world, argued Lakoff and Johnson, then cognition is embodied in a way not anticipated within traditional cognitive science.

Although Lakoff (1987) and Johnson (1987) developed the basic idea here in different ways (see also Lakoff and Johnson 1999, Johnson 2007), the general flavor of the view they share can be conveyed by considering a well-known example they discuss: that of love as a kind of journey. Those in a romantic relationship are often said to head off together, travel the same path, take wrong turns, retrace their steps, check their bearings, and pack their bags. For Lakoff and Johnson, this non-literal language is not merely peripheral expression useful for adding bells and whistles to the bustle of communication, but reflects something deep about how love is conceptualized. Importantly, the central organizing metaphor—love is a journey—involves a mapping from one domain (journeys) to another (love), where the source domain is informed by our bodily physicality and the embodied experience that we have as creatures who move through the world to achieve purposes and goals.

Spatial concepts, such as “front”, “back”, “up”, and “down”, provide perhaps the clearest examples in which such embodied experience exists. These concepts are articulated in terms of our body's position in, and movement through, space. Creatures like us that stand upright and move forward, for example, think of things that are “in front of” themselves as located in the line of vision or in terms of the direction they are moving. Creatures that were long and flat and moved backwards, by contrast, might have a very different concept of “in front of”, or perhaps none at all. Likewise for other spatial concepts, such as “up”. We might get a first-hand feel for the embodied nature of such concepts in situations when we approximate such creatures, such as when we try to use such concepts to guide our action when we are laying down, moving backwards, or even looking in a rear-vision mirror. The experience of “upness”, proponents of embodied cognition claim, depends on the particular kind of body we have, and how that body interacts with its surroundings (Lakoff and Johnson 1999).

This example can also be used to illustrate why embodied cognition has proven to be a contentious view within cognitive science and the philosophy of mind. One might argue that the dependence between our spatial concepts and our bodies identified above is mundane and unremarkable. Consider the best-known of classic mind-body dualists, René Descartes. In his famous quip in Meditation VI, that he (his mind, for Descartes) was not merely lodged in his body “like a pilot in a ship”, Descartes clearly recognizes that there is some sense in which cognition depends on, and is integrated with, the body. Proponents of embodied cognition must, minimally, show that “front” and “up” depend on the body in some sense that Descartes would deny.

Of more relevance to contemporary debates, proponents of embodied cognition must show that this dependence cannot be accommodated within traditional cognitive science and its working commitments (e.g., to the computational and representational theories of mind). At least this is true if embodied cognition is to mark a significant departure from, and pose a substantive challenge to, traditional cognitive science and associated philosophical views of the mind. And that requires, minimally, not only identifying some kind of dependence or other between cognition and the body, but specifying the nature of that dependence.

2.2 Enactive Cognition

The book The Embodied Mind (Varela, Thompson and Rosch 1991) was an attempt to re-direct the cognitive sciences by infusing them with the phenomenological perspective developed in the work of Maurice Merleau-Ponty (1945). (More ambitiously, and less successfully, it also aimed to integrate cognitive science with Buddhist philosophy; the book also included some passing discussion of psychoanalysis.) Varela, Thompson and Rosch argued that the standard division between pre-given, external features of the world and internal symbolic representations should be dropped, as it is unable to accommodate the feedback from embodied actions to cognition via the actions of a situated cognitive agent. The fundamental differences between their perspective and classical views lies in the answers to the questions of what cognition is, how it works, and when a system functions adequately.

Traditional accounts basically state that there are no computations without representations, and view cognition as successfully functioning when any device can support and manipulate symbols to solve the problem given to the system. Varela, Thompson, and Rosch introduced the concept of enaction to present and develop a framework that places strong emphasis on the idea that the experienced world is portrayed and determined by mutual interactions between the physiology of the organism, its sensorimotor circuit and the environment. Their emphasis on the structural coupling of brain-body-world constitutes the kernel of their program of embodied cognition, building on the classical phenomenological idea that cognitive agents bring forth a world by means of the activity of their situated living bodies. As the metaphor of “bringing forth a world” of meaningful experience implies, on this view knowledge emerges through the primary agent's bodily engagement with the environment, rather than being simply determined by and dependent upon either pre-existent situations or personal construals.

One implication of this view is that only a creature with certain features—e.g., eyes, hands, legs, and skills—can possess certain kinds of cognitive capacities. This is because cognition is a dynamic sensorimotor activity, and the world that is given and experienced is not only conditioned by the neural activity of the subject, but is essentially enacted in that it emerges through the bodily activities of the organism. This general approach encourages a view of enaction as essentially distinct from computation, as it is traditionally conceived. Varela, Thompson, and Rosch's most detailed illustration of their perspective is contained in their discussion of color experience and categorization, a discussion that received much attention in other venues (e.g., Thompson, Palacios, and Varela 1992; Thompson 1995), typically without reference to the more sweeping claims about embodiment, phenomenology, and Buddhism made in The Embodied Mind (see also Thompson 2007).

2.3 Rethinking Robotics

By the early 1990s, work in computational intelligence had started to explore ways of generating intelligent action in robots that shortly became known as the embodied approach to robotics. In a pair of papers Rodney Brooks (1991a, 1991b) had presented a general and accessible overview of a new kind of intelligent computational architecture, subsumption architecture, that was representation-lite and world-driven. In these respects, it departed from the representation-crunching intensive traditional views of planning and decision-making that had characterized classic AI and was characterized by Brooks as providing “intelligence without representation”. Together with computational work by Agre and Chapman (1987) and Suchman (1987), Brooks's approach suggested a view of computational intelligence in which control was governed bottom-up by behavior and interaction with the world, rather than by plentiful and often complicated internal algorithms and representations.

The sweep of work in reactive or behavior-based robotics, and its identification as marking a part of the embodied cognitive science, was heralded in Andy Clark's Being There: Putting Mind, World, and Body Back Together (1997). Clark here provided an integrative framework for a wide-range of emerging work on embodiment in the cognitive sciences. The big idea in Being There, one with lasting impact in embodied cognitive science, is that minds are not for thinking, traditionally conceived, but for doing, for getting things done in the world in real time. Rather than developing “walking encyclopedias”, robotics in the late 1980s and early 1990s was starting to focus on the dynamic interaction between body and world. Clark drew out affinities between this shift in the conception of intelligent action in computational systems and the emergence of the idea that cognition was scaffolded, embedded, and extended.

The work we have briefly recounted so far all concerns what we called cognition in the narrow sense, processes like human memory, categorization, and language processing (Lakoff and Johnson), human and nonhuman color categorization (Varela, Thompson, and Rosch), and decision-making and planning in robots and robotic systems (Clark). But embodied cognitive science aims to encompass cognition broadly construed. To convey the flavor of early work here, we briefly consider the work of James Gibson on perception, and Esther Thelen and Linda Smith (1994) on infant walking and reaching behaviors (cf. Shapiro 2011).

2.4 Ecological Perception

James Gibson's (1979) account of vision challenged the idea that the central problem that the visual system has to solve is how to reconstruct a full-blown, three-dimensional world from the information specified in the two-dimensional image on the retina. That idea has been prominent in traditional, information processing views of vision, including those of Rock (1983, 1997), Richard Gregory (1966) and Marr (1982). Gibson thinks that this is not a problem the visual system faces because vision does not begin with a static retinal array but with an organism actively moving through a visually rich environment. Gibson's positive approach to vision was to attempt to specify this richness, the information in what he called the ambient optic array, especially invariants in that array, which can be used to distinguish agent-dependent and objective features of one's environment. By both emphasizing the role of the movement of a perceiver and the integration of that perceiver in a larger, visually rich environment, Gibson has been championed as at least a nascent proponent of embodied vision (see also Wilson 2004: ch.7; Shapiro 2011: ch.2).

2.5 Dynamicism and Development

Esther Thelen and Linda Smith (1994) offered a radical challenge to traditional nativist views of cognitive development by applying dynamical systems theory to developmental psychology. One important implication of dynamical systems theory is that systems can generate novel behaviors (e.g., different solutions for reaching objects) through bodily activity, questioning the need to posit preprogrammed patterns that unfold over time. Raising fundamental questions about shared assumptions in the field, they argued that the stepping behavior in infants is not driven by maturational processes somehow determined by a hard-wired genetic code, but results instead from the interaction between the infant's initial spontaneous limb movements and changing contexts. Thus, they viewed this particular aspect of development as an emergent and self organizing product of many decentralized and local interactions taking place in real time, with the promise of generalizing this approach to cognitive development more generally.

2.6 Phenomenology

Finally by way of recent historical anchoring, the idea that an understanding of the body underpins the very possibility of experience has roots in the phenomenological works of Edmund Husserl (1913, 1931), Maurice Merleau-Ponty (1945), and John-Paul Sartre (1943), roots we saw acknowledged by Varela, Thompson, and Rosch in The Embodied Mind. This earlier continental tradition was explored constructively early on within artificial intelligence, with special reference to Heidegger, by Winograd and Flores (1986) and also formed the backdrop to Dreyfus's (1972) classic critique of traditional computationalism.

Embodied cognitive science pushes phenomenological accounts in new directions. It seeks not so much to understand how physicality opens up the experience of the self, the world and the others, but rather aims to specify the mechanisms that explain just how cognition is grounded in, and deeply constrained by, the bodily nature of cognitive agency. We shall not explore the convergence between the early phenomenological tradition and embodied cognitive science, although we recognize that phenomenological insights can be an indispensable resource for the ongoing investigation of consciousness, self-consciousness, action and intersubjectivity (see Gallagher 2009; Gallagher and Zahavi 2008; Thompson 2007; Gallagher 2005; Wheeler 2005).

3. What Embodied Cognition Is

The general characterization of embodied cognition with which we began provides the basis for what we will call the Embodiment Thesis:

Embodiment Thesis: Many features of cognition are embodied in that they are deeply dependent upon characteristics of the physical body of an agent, such that the agent's beyond-the-brain body plays a significant causal role, or a physically constitutive role, in that agent's cognitive processing.

All five of the early examples of work in embodied cognition that we briefly summarized in Section 2 accept the Embodiment Thesis. The working hypothesis of embodied cognitive science is that this thesis is true either because of the significant causal or the significant physically constitutive role of the body in cognitive processing. Proponents of embodied cognitive science have advocated both the causal and the constitutive claim about the role of the body in cognition. While the ascription of a physically constitutive role to the body in cognition has been taken to challenge traditional cognitive science in a more radical way than does that of a merely significant causal role to it, both versions of the Embodiment Thesis mark a departure from views of the mind dominant in traditional cognitive science.

Rather than following those who attempt to explain embodied cognition by appeal to the metaphor of grounding (e.g., Anderson 2003; Barsalou 1999, 2008; Glenberg and Robertson 2000; Glenberg et al. 2005), we think that the best way to articulate the Embodiment Thesis further is to specify the nature of the dependence of cognition on the body: what particular significant causal or physically constitutive roles does the body play in cognition? (cf. Shapiro 2010, 2011; A. Clark 2008; Thompson 2007; Wheeler 2005; Anderson 2003; M. Wilson 2002).

At the most general level, there are three such distinct functions or roles, each with its own implications for embodied cognitive science. The body can function as a constraint on cognition, as a distributor for cognitive processing, or as a regulator of cognitive activity.

We can specify each of these functions or roles more precisely, and draw attention to the distinctive implications that each has, and the work already described that appeals to each of these conceptions of the Embodiment Thesis.

Body as Constraint: an agent's body functions to significantly constrain the nature and content of the representations processed by that agent's cognitive system.

Amongst the alleged implications of the Body as Constraint thesis are two we would like to draw attention to:

  • Some forms of cognition will be easier, and will come more naturally, because of an agent's bodily characteristics; likewise, some kinds of cognition will be difficult or even impossible because of the body that a cognitive agent has.
  • Cognitive variation is sometimes explained by an appeal to bodily variation.

The work of Lakoff and Johnson on the permeation of cognition by metaphor, and that of Varela, Thompson, and Rosch on enactive cognition (especially in the domain of color perception and categorization), both exemplify the Body as Constraint thesis.

Body as Distributor: an agent's body functions to distribute computational and representational load between neural and non-neural structures.

Unlike the role of the body in the Body as Constraint thesis, here the body is taken as sharing in cognitive processing itself, serving to distribute cognitive tasks between brain and body. The Body as Distributor thesis has three putative implications worth making explicit:

  • Neural-realized cognitive structures may be more minimal than has been traditionally assumed, and in principle absent altogether.
  • Bodily structures themselves can be at least partial realizers of the physical machinery realizing cognitive processes.
  • Cognition is not bounded by the skull, so cognitive systems may include both non-neural parts of the body and even the beyond-the-body environment.

As these implications should suggest, it is Body as Distributor that is in play for those who take embodied cognition to challenge traditional views of mental representation (Gibson 1979 and Thelen and Smith 1994; see also Glenberg 1997 on memory; Shapiro 1997 and Wilson 2004: ch.7–8 on exploitative representation). The appeal to morphological computation (MacIver 2009), whereby properties of anatomical structures (such as the shape of bats ears) play a computational role in a cognitive process (such as echolocation), also relies on the Body as Distributor thesis. And in subsuming both an agent's bodily structures as well as aspects of its environment as forms of non-neural structures, the Body as Distributor thesis draws a connection between embodied cognition and versions of the extended mind thesis that appeal to concepts such as realization and scaffolding (Wilson and Clark 2009; R. Wilson 2004: ch.5–6; A. Clark 2003).

Closely related to the Body as Distributor thesis is:

Body as Regulator: an agent's body functions to regulate cognitive activity over space and time, ensuring that cognition and action are tightly coordinated.

We distinguish this version of the Embodiment Thesis from the Body as Distributor thesis because of distinctive supposed implications that ascribing a regulative role to the body in cognition has. These include:

  • Bodily structures facilitate the real-time execution of complex behaviors in response to complex and changing environmental events.
  • The body does not merely function to transduce from world-inputs to cognition, and later deliver worldly-output in the form of behavior from internal cognitive processing, but is integral to the online control of cognition itself.

Here the body has a feedback-driven role in cognitive processing, and the Body as Regulator thesis has been especially prominent in dynamic approaches to cognition (e.g., Port and van Gelder 1995; Beer 2000; Thelen and Smith 1994; cf. also Chemero 2009).

To summarize this section: we have distinguished three ways to articulate the Embodied Cognition Thesis, each specifying a particular way in which cognition depends on the body. Put more positively (and we think informatively), there are three distinctive functions or roles for the body that embodied cognitive science might ascribe: as a constraint on cognition, as a distributor for cognitive processing, and as a real-time regulator of cognitive activity. Such determinate forms of the Embodiment Thesis can ascribe the body either a significant causal role, or a physically constitutive role, in cognition.

4. Embodiment vs Tradition on Three Issues

In this section, we explore the revolutionary promise of embodied cognitive science with respect to three standard topics in the philosophy of mind and cognitive science: the modularity of mind, the nature of mental representation, and nativism. (For alternative views of situated cognition and modularity, representation, and nativism, see Bechtel 2009; Rowlands 2009; and Rupert 2009a). We begin with some general, putative contrasts between traditional and embodied cognitive science.

Traditional views have tended to assume the existence of discrete, internal representations realized by underlying, sharply distinct and highly specified mechanisms in the brain. These mechanisms, in turn, have been shaped by natural selection and encoded in genetic structures. Thus, traditional views have been influential in neuroscience and have been committed to individualism or internalism, the claim that cognition supervenes on the intrinsic, physical properties of the cognizer. The research strategy of “methodological solipsism” (Fodor 1980, 1981) is one classic version of this individualistic conception of cognition. The way in which central topics have been addressed deeply reflects the idea that cognitive phenomena can be accounted for locally, and that elements beyond the boundaries of the skull are of interest only insofar as they provide sensory input and allow behavioral output. Borrowing from Susan Hurley (1998), mainstream views of the mind have been committed to the “classical sandwich model”, the claim that cognition (in the narrow sense) is segregated from processing in low-level systems, therefore acting like meat in a sandwich em-breaded by perception and action.

Embodied cognitive science, by contrast, has modeled cognition as the product of dynamic interplay between neural and non-neural processes, with no general fracture between cognition, the agent's bodily experience, and real-life contexts. Here the body is viewed as constraining, distributing, or regulating cognitive processing. Specifying how the body performs these functions in particular environments raises the prospect that cognition itself is neither bounded by the brain, nor perhaps even by the body itself.

We can express the prima facie contrast between traditional and embodied cognitive science in terms of opposed views of mental representation, computation, and realization. Whereas many traditional accounts tend to see cognition as representationally localistic, computationally fixed, and as properly characterized independently of the realizing neuronal system, the features of the physical body and the surrounding environment., embodied cognitive science tends to view cognition as, representationally distributed, computationally dynamic, and as properly characterized only by reference to details of bodily realization. Embodied cognitive science thus motivates an interrogation of some of the fundamental assumptions made in cognitive science. (Such probing is also manifest in views of cognitive modeling that themselves are not especially embodied, such as connectionism, which we leave aside here.)

4.1 Modularity

Modular systems are independent, domain specific, encapsulated and hardwired, and function in a low-to-high processing hierarchy. When modularity theory was introduced in cognitive science (Fodor 1983), central cognition—cognition in the narrow sense—was characterized as non-modular, and as sharply distinct from modular peripheral systems, such as those governing perception and motor control (plus, as Fodor says, language). Fodor's claims about central cognition have been challenged by a wide variety of researchers (e.g., Carruthers 2006; Sperber 2001; Cosmides and Tooby 1997; Hirshfeld and Gelman 1994; see also R. Wilson 2005, 2008). These critics have argued that higher-cognitive processes also meet modularity criteria. In fact, the view that cognition in the narrow sense is also modular is sufficiently widespread across developmental, evolutionary, and cognitive psychology perhaps to count as the dominant form of modularity theory in contemporary cognitive science, despite Fodor's contrary view (Fodor 2000).

Both the traditional, Fodorian account of modularity and its rebellious, dominant offspring make reference to the body and the environment only indirectly. Modularity theory in either guise has little positive to say about the actual bearing of the beyond-the skull-entities on cognitive performance, other than viewing them as a source of input and repository of behavioral output. This view implies that all the tough work, cognitively speaking, is performed by cognition central alone, with peripheral processes simply providing inputs and executing instructions. The claims that cognitive processing occurs purely in the brain in a modular fashion, and accomplishes its business by operating essentially independently from motor planning and motor execution, however, are called into question by empirical studies of embodied experience.

One example of embodied experience in relation to language, one that exemplifies the Body as Constraint thesis is Glenberg's Indexical Hypothesis (Glenberg et alia 2009; Glenberg and Kaschak 2002; Glenberg and Robertson 1999, 2000). This view assumes that the understanding of a sentence is achieved through the activation of relevant action schemas, recruiting the same neural mechanisms active in overt behavior, and by affordance combination. Consider the sentences:

(1a)
After wading barefoot in the lake, Erik used his shirt to dry his feet.
(1b)
After wading barefoot in the lake, Erik used his glasses to dry his feet.

Although both (1a) and (1b) are grammatical, the reason why (1b) does not make the same kind of sense as (1a) does is because the affordances of glasses do not mesh with the action of drying. Understanding the meaning of such sentences requires knowing the possibilities offered by objects referred to in them. These possibilities are constrained by the interaction between bodily capabilities and the referents. Another study showed that people are faster to comprehend sentences where objects provide the affordances needed to accomplish an action (e.g., chair with four wheels to move large boxes) than sentences in which objects do not (e.g., a chair with four missing wheels (Kaschak and Glenberg 2000).

Such findings indicate that the construal of meaning is constrained by the embodied possibilities a scenario offers, and suggest that sensorimotor processes contribute to language comprehension. This conclusion would likely be rejected by modularists because their commitment to encapsulation and domain specificity implies that language processing cannot be modulated by motor information and background knowledge. Borghi, Glenberg and Kaschak (2004) have also reported that in language comprehension the perspective implied by the sentence guides the retrieval of information about objects, making conceptual knowledge available. Responses to questions over whether an object (e.g., a table) is part of the location described in the sentence are faster if there is compatibility between the object-noun and the perspective implied by the sentence (e.g., eating in a restaurant). Embodied responses are activated also in judging specific objects' properties, suggesting that vision and action are tightly integrated in the biological organism, and that they jointly constrain cognitive processing.

The sharp distinction between vision and action that is part of the traditional modular account of cognition has also been challenged by studies of embodied experience. For example, when people are asked to choose among stairs of different heights the one they can ascend most easily their responses are consistent with respect to their stair-climbing abilities (Warren 1984). Similar results have been reported for judgments of grasping objects (van Leeuwen et alia 1994) catching balls (Oudejams et alia 1996) and climbing walls (Wagman and Carello 2001). Studies such as these support the general claim that perceptual experience incorporates anticipated embodied interaction, suggesting either that vision and action are integrated, or at least feedback linked, in ways that are incompatible with the flow-through model of cognition postulated by modularists (Hurley 1998; R. Wilson 2010).

Even ascribing emotions, intentions or beliefs to someone appears to presuppose a certain bodily realization. Unlike traditional views, which posit an innate Theory of Mind module to account for social cognition (Leslie, 1987; Baron-Cohen 1995), an increasing number of studies in the field (Rizzolatti and Craighero 2004; Rizzolatti et alia 1996; Gallese et alia 1996), suggests that the understanding of other minds is primarily based on the motor expertise underlying our capacity to act. Such embodied understanding is not only different in nature from the modalities of mindreading as traditionally understood, but also strongly indicates that the meaning of intentional behavior can be grasped only if we know bodily, experientially or both what it is like to be in a mental state.

The processing that underwrites a variety of mental phenomena—discerning meaningful sentences from those that are not, extracting the possibilities afforded by objects, and detecting intentional behaviors—thus requires the orchestrated contribution of many components, neural and non-neural. If bodily states and brain's modality-specific systems serve as the grounding of various aspects of our cognitive life, then traditional, amodal domain-specific modules are not the meaningful elements of analysis they have been assumed to be under the Disembodiment Thesis. The claim that cognition heavily relies on the processes evolved to allow organisms to interact effectively with the environment suggests that the mind is not decoupled from embodied experience in the way presupposed by traditional views in cognitive science. Rather, the body can act as a constraint on cognition, and as a distributor for cognitive processing (see Section 3).

4.2 Mental Representation

At the heart of the traditional scientific understanding of cognition lies a particular conception of mental representation (Fodor and Pylyshyn 1988; Newell and Simon 1972). This conception claims that representations are symbolic structures with quasi-linguistic and combinatorial properties, act as vehicles of contents, and are what are primarily appealed to in explaining intelligent behavior. Mental representations are symbolic and abstract in that the same representation, such as “table” is used to mean different kinds of table. They are amodal in that the same representation can be employed when “table” is written or spoken about. Such representations are arbitrarily related to their referents because the way in which they are formed and deployed, along with their characteristics, bears no relationship to the physical and functional features of the referents. Thus, on the traditional view, not only are the internal representations employed in language, concept formation, and memory essentially distinct from those processed by the sensorimotor system, but their meaning is divorced from bodily experience. Supporters of this view have been committed to at least three fundamental principles:

  • information conveyed by a mental representation exhibits no modality-specific feature. In this sense, representations are autonomous from perceptual systems, bodily action, and their operational details;
  • knowledge is organized propositionally, with the meaning of words emerging from their relations to internal symbols. Determining the meaning of a symbol is like looking up in the dictionary in order to find which definition is given by its relation to other symbols;
  • internal representations are used to instruct motor programs, which are essentially separate and independent from cognition. Hence, cognitive processing is not inextricably shaped by bodily actions.

Recently, several alternative explanations for adaptive behavior have gained attention. While diverse, they all call into question the commitment to these principles. By advancing the idea that cognitive activity re-uses the processes and the representations deployed in perception and action, these explanations pose a serious challenge to the notion that conceptual and semantic representations are (or must be) amodal. There remain significant differences between these views with respect to the radicalness of their anti-representationalist leanings (see Chemero 2009).

Amongst the most influential anti-representationalist views is dynamical systems theory (Beer 1990, 2002, 2003; Brooks 1991a, 1991b, 2002; Thelen and Smith 1994; Van Gelder 1992). Dynamicists tend to minimize and sometimes even deny the need for a centralized representational processor. The notion of representation that these authors challenge is relatively specific: an internal model capable of reproducing the external environmental structure that is used by the cognitive agent to guide its behavior in relative independence from the world. Dynamical systems theory has proven to be popular in robotics and in work on artificial life, which has tried to explain adaptive behavior in terms of embodiment and embeddedness. As long as a situated creature can sense its world so as to allow its body to be directly influenced, abstract symbolic descriptions can be dispensed with.

Formulating an empirically adequate theory of intelligent behavior without appealing to representations at all, however, faces insuperable difficulties, and the idea that it is a relatively trivial matter to scale up from existing dynamic models to explain all of cognition remains wishful thinking and subject to just the problems that motivated the shift from behaviorism to cognitive science in the first place. For example, organism-environment interaction alone cannot account for anticipatory behavior, which involves internal factors beyond the immediate constraints of the environment to achieve or fulfill future needs, goals or conditions. Domains raising a representation-hungry problem (A. Clark 1997) are those involving reasoning about absent, non-existent or counterfactual states of affairs, planning, imaging and interacting (for a recent, contrasting view, see Chemero 2009).

Moreover, it is unclear why embodied cognitive science could not also be symbolic, representational, abstract, etc.. Puzzlement here is magnified by the fact that many self-styled embodied approaches to cognition are symbolic, representational, abstract, etc.. What they offer are specific views of what mental symbols and representations are, and how they function in our cognitive economy. Typically, they replace the conception of propositional encoding with one according to which symbols convey a modality-specific feature.

One view that adapts, rather than dispenses with, the notion of mental representation is Lawrence Barsalou's perceptual symbols theory (1999, 2003, 2008, 2009). This theory rests on the assumption that human cognition does not consist of amodal representations that bear arbitrary relations to their referents in the world, but rather representations whose activation patterns include information from various sensory modalities. For example, the symbolic structure that represents the color of an object in its absence, say, during imagery or problem solving tasks, depends upon the same neural system that is recruited when the color is actually perceived. Thus, not only do cognitive and perceptual mechanisms share representational states, but cognitive processing essentially re-activates sensorimotor areas to run perceptual simulations. A further implication is that perceptual symbols are not independent of the biological system that embodies them and the content conveyed would be likely to vary if intelligent systems varied physically. Since appeal to the body and sensorimotor processes constrains the nature of symbols available to cognition, Barsalou's theory exemplifies the Body as Constraint thesis.

While defenders of modal representations argue that there is little direct empirical evidence for amodal representations, with the adoption of the traditional model of representation largely motivated by theoretical reasons (Barsalou et alia 2003, 85), and that their own views are empirically plausible (see Pecher et alia 2003; Zwaan and Yaxley 2003; Glenberg and Kaschak 2002; Martin and Chao 2001; Solomon and Barsalou 2001; Martin et alia 2000; Spivey et alia 2000), they also underestimate the difficulty of providing definitive evidence against amodal accounts. As Machery (2007) points out, subjects' performance can be accommodated by both modal and amodal explanations (see also Rupert 2006). Since most amodal advocates (e.g., Simon 1995; Fodor 1975) do not deny the involvement of perceptual areas during cognitive tasks, such as visual imagery, showing that visual cortex is activated when, say, imaging the green of an apple does not provide evidence for Barsalou's theory over the amodal account. Moreover, as traditionalists point out, some mental problems are solved without (reportable) imagery, and subjects sometimes draw upon knowledge stored in modality-free representational systems. Hence, generalizing results concerning the use of perceptual simulations in some tasks to all tasks, which is required for a general modal theory of representation, is problematic.

4.3 Nativism

Most researchers today recognize that cognition develops as a result of the dynamic interplay of innateness and learning, even if it is not always clear how this interplay proceeds. On the two-dimensional view of nativism defended by one of us elsewhere that distinguishes between strong and weak forms of nativism, (R. Wilson 2004: ch.3), strong nativists are committed to the following two theses:

  1. the internal structures and processes necessary for the development of an individual are rich, complex and causally powerful;
  2. processes external to the individual play a secondary causal role in the acquisition and development of these structures.

Strong anti-nativists (such as classic empiricists), by contrast, deny both of these general views.

Paradigms committed to strong nativism has produced remarkable results in the field of cognitive development of infants, in domains including arithmetic and physics (Baillargeon 2002, Baillargeon et alia 1985; Spelke et alia 1992, 1995). Those critical of nativism have labeled nativism as antidevelopmental in nature (Haith 1998), and claimed that conclusions that the mind consists of hard-wired traits that unfold through maturation on a fixed pattern conflict with the very idea of learning and flexibility (Quartz and Sejnowski 1997; Thelen and Smith 1994; Bates et alia 1995; Karmiloff-Smith 1994). If nativism were true, then the body and environment (including culture), while relevant, should be regarded as no more than “triggers” of ontogenetically determined features that develop in predictable ways.

Although prima facie it might be thought that embodied cognition has no distinctive implications for the ongoing debate between “nativism” and “empiricism”, one contribution of embodied cognitive science here lies in its specific exploration of the roles that the body plays in cognitive processing. These roles often pose challenges to strong nativist and strong empiricist views alike. As such, embodied cognitive science does not simply assume, with empiricists, that cognitive processing depends to a great extent on environmental exposure, and that cognition is a causal reflection of it. Further, while empiricists typically conceive of the world as something objectively given to a subject, who thus forms a static representation of it that then guides action, embodied cognitive science addresses how the dynamic interplay between embodied agent and the world generates cognition. It is this focus on dynamic, worldly interplay that provides one link from embodied to embedded cognition within situated cognitive science. Here we will explore whether, and in what ways, embodied cognitive science has been thought to undermine strong nativist claims.

By and large, embodied cognitive science generally downplays the internal richness needed to perform complex behavior (Rupert 2009a), highlighting the fact that cognitive processing and development are deeply affected by perturbation across changes in the environment and the body in action (Griffiths and Stotz 2000; Clark and Toribio 1994; Thelen and Smith 1994; Varela, Thompson and Rosch 1991; Ballard 1991). The body in action is a powerful constraint on how organisms conceive their niche, as this constraint allows certain interactions and experiences to have an effect on concept formation and understanding of linguistic meaning. For example, by having fingers capable of grasping objects and legs capable of walking and climbing walls, we sort and categorize stimuli in ways that are radically different from, say, the ways in which they are sorted by butterflies. One's own ordinarily kinesthetic experiences essentially frame the acquisition and development of cognitive structures. That appears to support the significant contribution of the beyond-the-skull components in realizing cognitive phenomena, and in terms of the framework we have introduced (see section 3) it exemplifies both the Body as Constraint and Body as Distributor theses.

Examples supporting the Body as Distributor thesis come from non-nativist research on perception. Many putative modules, such as those for sensory processing, develop partly via learning. In the newborn, sensory modalities and cortical pathways are not as differentiated as are those of mature brains but appear to emerge through a series of strengthening interactions between the active body and the environment (Quartz and Sejnowski 1997). This implies that in infants few, if any, cortical pathways are domain specific and highly specialized for most tasks, but during development by virtue of active interactions with the environment get recruited and tuned up for processing particular stimuli (Elman et alia 1996). Other empirical results in the study of sensory modalities point in the same direction, rejecting the idea that the senses are dedicated modules wired up for perception at birth, with the body's interactions with the environment playing only a secondary role in constraining or even determining the nature of perceptual processing.

Conversely, it seems that many relevant capacities are not as domain-specific as they may initially appear. For example, even though the visual cortex appears dedicated to process a particular class of information, it can be recruited by a different sense modality during the reading of Braille—whether the subject has congenital, acquired or induced (blindfold) blindness (Sadato et alia 1996, 1998; see also Pascual-Leone and Hamilton 2001; Pascual-Leone et alia 1998). If we extend these observations to face recognition, further support for the hypothesis that specialization begins at later stage of development, by virtue of experience, arises. Despite the fact that the fusiform face area (FFA) is highly selective to faces (Kanwisher 2000; Kanwisher et alia 1997), data suggest that it can also be activated in response to non-face features, such as birds and cars, provided that subjects have a substantial expertise in those categories (Gauthier et alia 2000).

While this evidence does not call into question the idea of brain specialization, it does indicate the role of bodily activity in generating the differentiation of cortical pathways and the emergence of specific functions, such as direction-selective responses in the visual cortex. Embodied interactions with the world shape and control the mechanisms responsible for this information processing, offering support for the Body as Distributor and Body as Regulator theses. This research also suggests that embodied interactions and the beyond-the-body environment may themselves be partial realizers of the corresponding cognitive activity. Including non-neural parts of the body amongst the physically constitutive building blocks of cognition suggests a more radical reading of embodied cognition.

Strong nativist claims may also be challenged when considering cognition beyond the sense modalities. The issue concerning how much language-specific information, if any, is innate has been one of the dominant topic in cognitive science and the literature relevant to the matter provides us with a wide range of possibilities. Some (Pinker 1994; Chomsky 1975, 1980), for instance, conclude that a specific innate endowment help explain several aspects of children's linguistic performance. Others (Cowie 1999; Bates 1998; Bates et alia 1995), instead, find this conception unparsimonious and puzzling from an evolutionary standpoint, and claim that nonlinguistic learning factors significantly constrain and control the range of possibilities that characterize spoken language.

Encouragement for this latter view comes from evidence that shows how language acquisition heavily depends, beyond environmental exposure, on a number of different factors, including working memory and general cognitive development (Seung and Chapman, 2000). First language learning, for instance, builds on what children already know about objects and events they experienced and this knowledge background provides them with the basis onto which they can map words (see E. Clark 2004 for reviews). Their ability to develop a language is also affected by information they receive from adults and caregivers. Accordingly, they will be sensitive and prone to pick up the regularities they hear more often, such as frequent words, sounds, inflections and grammar constructions (Saffran et alia 1996; De Villiers 1985). Also social interactions appear to be crucial to the process of language acquisition. Children more quickly learn to name things that are physically present during a conversation and to which the joint focus of attention is directed (E . Clark 2003; Tomasello 2003). Even language development in children affected by Autistic Spectrum Disorder (ASD), commonly held to have a genetic origin, can be modulated by parental and social factors, such as gender and high level of education (Grandgeorge et alia 2009). The same holds for normal development in which the size and production of a child's vocabulary appears to be deeply related to parents' lexical richness, monitoring of language interaction and socioeconomic status (Hoff 2003; Hoff and Naigles 2002).

Implications of these findings support the Body as Distributor thesis and place primary emphasis on the view that properties of language-learning process heavily depend on the environmental and social conditions within which an individual is raised. They also indicate that direct engagement with the world and other individuals regulate language functioning and that this functioning is inseparably linked to and exploits the affordances of the situation within which language processes take place.

Further support for the Body as Distributor thesis comes from evidence that differences in early gesture explain disparities in children's vocabulary size (Rowe and Goldin-Meadow 2009a). Parents frequently appealing to gesture to translate their words provide children with an opportunity to learn particular meanings by hands and this parent-child gesture use accounts for the correlation between early gesture of children at 14 months and later vocabulary skills and size at 54 months. Although gesture is not the only factor mediating language development, evidence strongly suggests that exposure to a broader range of embodied interactions determines lexical richness and vocabulary growth. Other findings (Rowe and Goldin-Meadow 2009b; Rowe et alia 2008; Ozçalişkan and Goldin-Meadow 2005; Iverson and Goldin-Meadow 2005; Acredolo and Goodwyn 1988) point in the same direction: parents who gesture very frequently encourage the child to gesture and gesturing may then influence language development. These findings collectively suggest that if learning is body-based and correlated with nonlinguistic aspects of behavior, then appeals to some forms of innateness seem unlikely to account for such features of language development.

It should be clear that no form of the Embodiment Thesis denies the biological grounds of language processes and cognitive activity. What it challenges is the adequacy of current research programs that continue to build heavily on the idea that language and cognitive development rely on processes and mechanisms that are domain-specific and causally powerful. Embodied cognitive science has generated evidence that suggests that non-neural structures are not merely secondary resources. Rather, they variously foster, constitute, and determine the acquisition and development of specific psychological capacities, including those operant in language and perceptual processing.

5. Empirical Domains for Embodied Cognition

In this section, we focus on five empirical domains in which an embodied perspective has motivated novel insights about cognition and the mind: visual consciousness, concepts, memory, the understanding of other minds, and moral cognition. We limit discussion to these five topics for reasons of space and clarity, not because these are the only five to which these theoretical tools can be fruitfully applied (see Gibbs 2006 for an extensive presentation and discussion of a wider range of applications).

5.1 Visual Consciousness

Visual consciousness is typically viewed as a process within the brain. Yet the issues about the relationship between conscious experience and neural structures are empirically and philosophically controversial. Brain plasticity, for example, provides some reason to think that there could be different neural substrates for a given conscious visual experience, both within the same individual at different times, or different individuals at the same time. And even if one assumes that brain states alone suffice for visual conscious experience (‘the minimal substrate thesis’ for short), one might still wonder whether neural correlates of visual consciousness systematically match the content of perceptual experience. While a considerable number of neuroscientists seem to share the commitment to the matching-content doctrine, the literature on the neural correlates of consciousness, as Noë and Thompson (2004) point out, says very little, if anything, to prove that neural states match visual conscious experience in content.

Hence, while seemingly obvious, upon closer examination the brain-centered view (endorsed by prominent scholars, such as Koch 2004; Chalmers 2000; Metzinger 2000; Crick and Koch 1990, 1998; Crick 1996) appears problematic. Defenders of embodied cognition (most notably Noë and Thompson 2004; Noë, 2004; O'Regan and Noë, 2001; Thompson and Varela, 2001; Hurley, 1998;) advance several arguments to cast doubt on the matching-content doctrine and the minimal substrate thesis. One argument concerns the incommensurability of the features of the content of visual experience. Whereas the content of a visual experience is experiential—that is, represented from a point of view, active and attentional—none of these properties seem to be ascribable to the content of a neural representational system (Noë and Thompson 2004). Roughly put, while animals and people experience the world relative to an egocentric standpoint and, phenomenologically speaking, attend to portions of it that can be revealed and explored through appropriate movements of the head and body, neurons do not (Noë 2004; O'Regan and Noë 2001). Just as the sense of our visual conscious experience depends on our implicit mastery of sensorimotor contingencies—a set of rules concerning how sensory stimulation varies as a function of movement—conscious visual experience is a temporary pattern of skillful activity. It is something we do (Noë and O'Regan 2002). Whether or not these authors are right, their claim is significant, as it urges neuroscientists and philosophers to pursue a rather different approach to understanding the basis of visual consciousness (Gangopadhyay, Madary, and Spicer, 2010).

Two striking, experimentally-generated phenomena that indicate surprising dimensions to the limitations of our explicit visual knowledge have been invoked in support of embodied views of visual consciousness. The first of these, change-blindness (Levins and Simons 1997), occurs when changes to a visual scene are coordinated with the short periods during which a subject is saccading; the second, inattentional blindness (Mack and Rock 1998; Simons and Chambris 1999), when such changes occur while subjects are engaged in an attention-intensive task. Under such conditions, subjects can fail to report noticing even massive and (to other observers) striking changes to a visual scene, such as the appearance of a dancing gorilla walking through the middle of the scene.

These phenomena call into question the traditional assumption that the brain reconstructs detailed and accurate internal models of the visual field. This assumption, while widespread, has obscured two important points, each motivating a shift to an embodied perspective on vision:

  1. Vision is not a mere brain process devoted to constructing mental models, but rather a skill of the whole situated, embodied agent, one whose movements are crucial to visual agency (cf. Gibson 1979)
  2. Visual processing should be recognized as a temporally extended activity, where such activity is guided in part by the agent itself.

That subjects are usually capable of noticing large changes to, and unexpected elements in, the visual field, show several things. Most importantly for present purposes, visual conscious experience is a skillful engagement with the world and heavily depends on what we do with our eyes, head and body to bring something into visual consciousness. This implies that we must ‘do’ something in order to engage in a conscious experience, and only by way of our bodily movements can attentional processes be directed to the environment. Thus, body and world not only matter as sources of causal influence, but act as non-neural substrates of the machinery realizing the enactment of visual consciousness.

Given the current state of neuroscience, the conclusion that phenomenal experience cannot be explained by processes in the head seems hard to accept (Block 2005). Distributed consciousness has inescapable consequences. One might assume, for example, that if two people with the same internal states were in different environments, their conscious experience would be different and that a brain in a vat would not have any visual conscious experience, because a brain in a vat has no body and accordingly cannot interact with the environment as we normally do.

Regardless of how convincing these arguments are, the genuine insight about the nature of consciousness that embodied cognitive science has generated is that the character of visual experience results from the way we are dynamically hooked up to the world. Sensorimotor coupling with the environment is crucial in providing the organism with the proprioceptive/kinesthetic feedback necessary for the sense of ownership of movement. When we touch an object, for example, we do not exclusively have experience of it, but while touching and being touched we experience ourselves moving, including the feeling of controlling our own body in action. The account that agency (the sense of controlling one's own body) originates in processes that evolved for interaction with the environment—that is, mechanisms for sensory processing and motor control (Tsakiris et alia 2007; Berti et alia 2005; Haggard 2005; Farrer et alia 2003; Leube et alia 2003; Farrer and Frith 2002; Chaminade and Decety, 2002)—suggests that embodied experience underpins self awareness.

Consistent with the view that consciousness and action may be closely related, brain imaging studies have shown that delusions of control, often seen in schizophrenic patients, are associated with a failure in the mechanism by which the predicted consequences of an action are linked to the intended sequence of motor commands (Frith et alia 2000). Deficits of this kind suggest that the ability to control and hold conscious thoughts may recruit the same mechanisms employed in interactions with the environment.

5.2 Concepts

A common assumption in traditional accounts is that concepts are context-independent amodal symbols. There are several problems with this view and research is strong in suggesting that conceptual capacities incorporate and are structured in terms of patterns of bodily activity. Talking or thinking about objects have been suggested to imply the reactivation of previous experiences, and the recruitment of the same neural circuits involved during perception and action towards those objects would allow the re-enactment of multimodal information (color, size, width, etc). In principle, the view that concepts are represented through abstract symbols, rather than modality specific features, and cognition requires stable forms of representation should be either dropped or strongly revisited.

Evidence reveals that people construct concepts quite differently in distinct contexts (Solomon and Barsalou 2001; Wisniewski 1998; Medin and Shoben 1988; Barsalou and Ross 1986), and conceptualization can vary across individuals and be different for the same individual in distinct occasions. When subjects are asked to provide definitions for categories, like bird and chair (see Barsalou 1993) only 44% of the features in one person's definition exist in another person's definition and a great deal of flexibility exists also within individuals providing definitions for the same categories two weeks later.

Also the pattern of interaction entertained with an object may influence the way conceptualization is done. People dealing with certain items and their structural parts more frequently and extensively than others will tend to develop representations that reflect the nature of their interactions with them. Not surprisingly, distinct tree experts (such as a taxonomist, a landscape worker and a park maintenance personnel) will categorize trees in ways that differ from one other and from non-specialists (Medin et alia 1997). These studies draw upon and reinforce the theory of perceptual symbol systems (Barsalou 1999) and strongly indicate that perceptual and motor mechanisms are engaged when people perform conceptual processing. They also suggest that completely modality-free categories are rare, because concepts, whether concrete or abstract, are distributed over modality specific domains and involve reactivation of states in sensorimotor systems (Boronat et alia 2005; Gallese and Lakoff 2005; Barsalou et alia 2003; Tranel et alia 2003; Beauchamp and Martin 2007; Martin and Chao 2001; Martin et alia 2000; Pulvermüller 1999; Martin et alia 1996).

Further support for the theory that modalities play a pivotal role in concept representation comes from work on property verification (Solomon and Barsalou 2001; Pecher et alia 2003). Property verification consists in deciding whether a property in a specific modality fits an object, for example, the auditory property loud for BLENDER and the visual property green for APPLE. Findings demonstrated that subjects performing the task responded faster and more accurately when the previous verification was in the same modality (e.g., LEAVES—rustling) rather than in a different modality (e.g., CRANBERRIES—tart) (Pecher et alia 2003). The effect is explained by assuming that concept representation does not activate the abstract features of an object but uses the same system that is recruited for perception in different modalities. So, if the auditory system is used for hearing the sound of a blender, then to run a simulation (that is, form a concept) of the sound of a BLENDER the auditory system will be recruited. Slower responses in different modalities are associated with cost in switching attention, and the effort made in switching modalities speaks against the idea that knowledge is represented in a modality-free manner. Conversely, there should not be any differences between same-modality and different-modality conditions.

The fact that sensorimotor circuits get recruited, or rather, re-used for purposes, like concept formation or language processing, other than those they have been established for, such as motor and sensory information processing, strongly favors modal and embodied approaches to cognition over amodal and abstract ones. It also offers an alternative perspective on several topics in the sciences of the mind, including the degree of modularity in cortical organization, the development of the brain and the localization hypothesis of cognitive functions (see Anderson 2010 for a recent theory of neural re-use).

While these findings have provoked revisions to traditional accounts, the specific conclusion that sensorimotor processes are physically constitutive of conceptual processing has not been universally accepted on the grounds that the data are consistent with different theories (see Mahon and Caramazza 2008; Rupert 2009b: ch.9–10).

5.3 Memory

Consider the case of remembering how tools and ingredients are displayed in the kitchen in order to instruct someone to bake a cake. Traditional accounts would claim that information storage and retrieval should be featured as essentially independent from sensorimotor mechanisms. However, it does not seem from empirical evidence that remembering appeals to the semantic relatedness of ingredients and tool but rather consists of forming an image revealing where ingredients and tools are located as a function of our imagined movement throughout the kitchen. The location itself serves as external aid to memory and imagined embodied actions within the location afford the retrieval of information that help figure out what is needed to bake a cake (Cole et alia 1997). That the time needed to recall and retrieve information is constrained by the imaged spatial layout with reference to the observer's body has been shown by a different set of studies (Bryant and Wright 1999; see also Waller et alia 2008; Nori et alia 2004; McNamara 2003; Waller et alia 2002).

Embodiment effects on memory have been also found in accomplishing particular tasks, including reasoning and language understanding, and several recent works suggest that memory reflects different bodily capacities (M. Wilson 2001; Glenberg 1997; Carlson 1997). For instance, hand-arm movements, that often accompany speech, do not play a mere communicative role but facilitate the maintenance of spatial representations in working memory (Wesp et alia 2001) and recalling enacted action-phrases is significantly easier with respect to purely verbal encoding (see Engelkamp, 1998 for a review). This effect suggests that motor information may have become part of the memory trace, thus indicating that action-phrases merely heard do not produce the same effective encoding of real enacted action-sentences. Empirical literature also supports the hypothesis that the memory trace includes the body posture in which the experience was acquired (Barsalou et alia 2003). Drawing on congruent-posture and incongruent-posture conditions, behavioral data have shown that the body contains the cue to recall autobiographical events and the retrieval of a memory of a past experience gets facilitated if the body posture assumed during that experience is reassumed (Dijkstra et alia 2007). Further evidence of the body's constraining capacities has been provided by Presson and Montello (1994). In this experiment subjects were first asked to memorize the location of objects in a room and then, while blindfolded, were asked to point to the objects. Pointing was fast and accurate. While some subjects were then asked to imagine rotating 90° and to point to the objects again, the others were asked to actually rotate 90° and to point to the objects. In this second half of the experiment, pointing was slow and inaccurate only for those who imagined the rotation.

5.4 Other Minds

Folk psychology is the commonsense understanding we have of one another in terms of internal mental states, such as beliefs and desires, that in combination can be used to predict and explain human behaviour. The traditional perspective on understanding folk psychology presupposes that our attributional tendencies here are generated by an internal theory (Premack and Woodruff 1978), and on some versions of this “theory theory” view of folk psychology, this internal theory is executed by a theory of mind module in the brain (Leslie 1987). Opponents of this view, simulation theorists, minimize the role played by the kind of abstract theorizing typical of theories, and question whether such a theory of mind module exists. They argue that discoveries and findings from neuroscience are consistent with the approach that sees social cognition as a form of body-based simulation, and conceives of bodily states as the building blocks of intersubjectivity (Oberman and Ramachandran 2007; Iacoboni and Dapretto 2006; Rizzolatti and Craighero 2004; Ferrari et alia 2003; Rizzolatti et alia 2001; Umiltà et alia 2001; Gallese and Goldman 1998; Rizzolatti and Arbib 1998).

The discovery of mirror neurons in macaques and humans–cells with sensorimotor properties that fire both when performing an action and when observing the very same action executed by other individuals—has been seized on by simulation theorists and other opponents of the theory-theory view in support of their preferred explanatory frameworks. (For critical evaluations of fMRI and PET studies aiming to show the presence of a mirror neuron system in humans see Turella et alia 2009; see also Hickok 2008.)

Indirect evidence in support of a mirror system in humans comes from studies on the reactivity of cerebral rhythm, the posterior alpha rhythm and the central mu rhythm, during action observation. While the mu rhythm is present during motor rest, it disappears when active movements are performed. Electrophysiological results have shown that observing the action executed by another individual blocks the mu rhythm of the observer, thus providing evidence for a resonance system, which links the observed action to the action of the subject's own motor repertoire (Oberman et alia 2005; Cochin et alia 1998; Gastaut and Bert 1954, Cohen-Seat et alia 1954). Another body of evidence in support of the existence of an observation/execution matching system in humans comes from transcranial magnetic stimulation studies (Fadiga et alia 1995). Left motor cortex of normal participants was stimulated both during the observation of intransitive and goal-directed arm movements. Motor evoked potentials were recorded from various hand muscles. The results showed a selective increase in motor evoked potentials in the regions that participants normally recruit for producing the observed action. That means that when we observe a person grasping a cup of coffee the very same neural population that controls the execution of the grasping movement becomes active in the observer's motor areas.

On this view, it is the embodied imitation of the observed body in action that directly enables us to recognize others as persons like us, not an abstract, inferential and theory-like process. The hypothesis that action understanding is based on a resonance mechanism does not exclude the possibility that other processes, based on movement descriptions, could influence this function. It simply highlights the primacy of a direct, automatic and prereflexive matching between the observation and the execution of action. By accepting this premise the traditional tension between acting and thinking considerably shrinks, as the capacity to detect the meaning of the behaviors of others consists in employing the same resources used to model our motor behavior.

5.5 Moral Cognition

A dominant tradition in moral theory for the past several centuries has placed reason at the center of moral thought and moral behavior. Kohlberg's cognitive developmental work on moral cognition (1969) reflects this spirit. Kohlberg consistently endorsed, along the lines of classic cognitivism, a rationalist model in which emotions and body states may be taken into account by reason but it is pure reasoning that ultimately leads to moral decisions. His paradigm inspired most leading studies in the field, all characterized by the common view that cognitive processing in the moral domain is disengaged from the economy of emotions and body.

Recent work in embodied moral cognition challenges this paradigm. Social intuitionist models, for instance, claim that many moral judgments appear to be the result of affective components (Greene and Haidt 2002; Haidt et alia 1993). Subjects presented with descriptions of actions that were harmless but likely to produce a strong affective response/reaction (e.g., eating one's pet dog after a car killed it) often judge the action described by the sentence to be wrong. When pressed to provide a justification, subjects typically focus on nonexistent harms associated with the actions, indicating that conscious reasoning is not a good predictor of their judgment of wrongness. If affective reactions play a pervasive role in moral judgments, a role that escapes (and is in fact masked by) conscious reflection, this suggests that moral cognition is shaped and constrained by “gut feelings”, rather than the product of abstract reasoning.

Further examples supporting the embodied nature of moral cognition come from the experimental literature that specifically addresses disgust/repugnance (Lerner et alia 2004; Wheatley and Haidt, 2005). Disgust involves strong physical components and explicit bodily changes, such as nausea, stomach-turning, throat clenching, food-expulsion, thrusting out of the tongue, and wrinkling of the nose. Even if disgust evolved as a food-related reaction indicating that a substance should be either avoided or expelled, it is also an emotion of social rejection, extending its reach and influence into the domain of moral cognition (Niedenthal et alia 2005; Prinz 2004).

Recent experiments have shown, for example, that the feeling of disgust induced by the exposure to a bad smell or dirty looking room makes moral judgments more severe (Schnall et alia 2008a), and that subjects who physically cleanse themselves then find certain moral actions to be less wrong than do participants not exposed to a cleanliness manipulation (Schnall et alia 2008b). These ‘moral harshness’ effects may be induced even for moral evaluations of certain issues or groups. In a recent study (Inbar et alia 2009) experimenters found that people reported more negative evaluations towards gays and lesbians when exposed to a noxious odor in the room than when no odor was present. Even anger has been shown to deeply shape the representations available to moral judgment. Anger over a traffic incident before going to work may lead to an increased reliance on prejudice when interviewing a job candidate afterwards (DeSteno et alia 2004).

The empirical literature suggests that the specificity of one's own bodily cues and affective reactions (e.g., nausea, arousal) guide and constrain cognitive processing in social and moral domains. In addition, it suggests that dramatic deficits occur when subjects do not exhibit and make use of these cues and reactions. Damasio's somatic marker hypothesis (1994, 1996) claims that bodily states, normally triggered during emotional experiences, are re-enacted whenever certain situations occur or are considered, and such re-enaction avoids deleterious consequences of one's course of action. When the capacity to integrate these feelings (either positive or negative) with one's own knowledge of facts is severely compromised, as is the case in ventro-medial-prefrontal cortex (VMPFC) patients, making judgments and decisions is severely impaired. As a ‘gambling task’ (Bechara et alia 1994) reveals, in the absence of embodied states (e.g., anticipatory skin conductance response) VMPFC patients miss a fundamental source of information about the possible outcomes associated with different actions (see also Bechara et alia 2000). If Damasio's hypothesis is correct, then the affective and bodily feedback implicated in various types of moral judgment do not simply lead to different understandings and conceptualizations of the situation at hand, but are part of the physical machinery realizing cognitive processes.

While we think there is broad empirical support for the idea that sensorimotor activity and central cognitive processing are more deeply dependent on one another than previously thought, and for the view that bodily activity can constrain, distribute, and regulate neural activity, embodied cognitive science has also been invoked in support of more radical philosophical ideas about cognition and the mind. For example, as we noted in Section 3, some have argued that embodied cognition implies that cognition itself leaks out into the body (and ultimately the environment (A. Clark 2008). Proponents of the traditional view that cognition is skull-bound have argued, in reply, both that this inference is mistaken and the view it leads to is implausible and metaphysically extravagant (Rupert 2009b; Adams and Aizawa 2008; Aizawa 2007). We take up such further philosophical issues in Section 6 below.

6. Sharper Divides Over Embodied Cognition

The difference that embodied cognition makes to the three issues we discussed in Section 4—the modularity of mind, the nature of mental representation, and nativism about the mind, remains a live issue of debate in the philosophy of mind and cognitive science. The same is true of the interpretation of the particular empirical results described in Section 5.

We think that some of these disagreements both reflect and contribute to sharper divides over the significance of embodied cognitive science. We discuss four such issues in this concluding section, structuring our discussion around four corresponding questions:

  1. What payoffs for empirical research does embodied cognitive science have?
  2. To what extent can the findings generated by embodied cognitive science be accommodated by the tools of traditional cognitive science?
  3. What is the relationship between embodied cognition and the extended mind thesis?
  4. What implications for agency, the self, and subjectivity does accepting the embodied nature of cognition have?

Our aim here is not to provide extensive answers to these questions, but to indicate briefly what our review of contemporary work on embodied cognition indicates about the issues that they raise. We take each in turn.

6.1 Payoffs for empirical research

Insofar as embodied cognitive science has its origins in a variety of dissatisfaction with traditional cognitive science, it has explored novel questions about cognition and generated results that have, in some cases, been unexpected. As we have seen in the previous section, embodied cognitive science continues to produce empirical research that is interesting, novel, and controversial. In this respect, embodied cognitive science is not simply (or chiefly) a philosophical mantra empty of empirical content, but a cluster of perspectives on cognition whose empirical orientation and rootedness cannot be questioned.

But there is an alternative position that one might take on this question that is more circumspect about the empirical payoff of “embodied cognition”. While there is no doubt about the empirical “oomph” of embodied cognitive science, the extent to which this work either challenges traditional views or requires one or another of the determinate forms of the Embodiment Thesis that we articulated—Body as Constraint, Body as Distributor, and Body as Regulator—might be questioned. For example, Lawrence Shapiro (2011) has argued that the views of Lakoff and Johnson on metaphor, thought, and the body are fully compatible with central tenets of traditional cognitive science, such as the idea that cognition centrally involves computation over internal mental representations (see also Shapiro 2010). Robert Rupert (2009b) has argued more generally for compatibility between the empirical findings of embodied cognitive science and the core assumptions of traditional cognitive science. Likewise, Fred Adams (2010) has argued that one should distinguish between the empirical premise in arguments for the embodiment of cognition, and a requisite logical-metaphysical premise, and that the latter of these is seldom supported. (Adams focuses on Glenberg's work on meaning affordances (Glenberg and Kaschak 2002; see also Glenberg and Robertson 2000, Glenberg et al. 2005), but his claims are quite general). From this perspective, one should sift the empirical wheat of embodied cognitive science from the revolutionary, philosophical chaff that has characterized that movement from the outset. This issue, in turn, brings us to our next issue.

6.2 Accommodation by traditional cognitive science

For the most part, questioning whether embodied cognitive science delivers on the revolutionary front has proceeded not by drawing on general considerations—say, of the underdetermination of theory by data—but by a detailed consideration of particular empirical results (cf. Rupert 2009b: ch.11, however). By its nature, this kind of argument, which we endorse the need for, is time- and space-consuming, especially given the diversity of work that falls under the label “embodied cognition”. This is more so in the evaluation of this type of challenge to proponents of embodied cognition. Here we settle for making one general point about the state of the dialectic here, and state where we believe the burden of proof lies.

Suppose that we simply grant the historical claim that the focus and orientation of traditional cognitive science has not taken cognition to be dependent, in any significant way, on the body. What does this imply about the explanatory power of traditional cognitive science vis-a-vis the Embodiment Thesis? Recall that we have analyzed the Embodiment Thesis in terms of three determinate theses about the nature of the dependence of cognition on the body, each with its own particular implications:

Body as Constraint: an agent's body functions so as to significantly constrain the nature and content of the representations processed by that agent's cognitive system.

Body as Distributor: an agent's body functions so as to distribute computational and representational load between neural and non-neural structures.

Body as Regulator: an agent's body functions so as to regulate cognitive activity over space and time, ensuring that cognition and action are tightly coordinated.

Those seeking to resist the challenge that one or more of these views poses to traditional cognitive science have two primary options: to deny the truth of the corresponding thesis, or to reject the inference(s) from that thesis to claims about what traditional cognitive science can and cannot explain.

Defenders of traditional cognitive science have considerable dialectical power available here, and they have made effective use of a familiar argumentative strategy in resisting the embodied cognition challenge: to grant that there is a weak or limited sense in which one or more of these particular embodiment thesis is correct, but argue that the inferential gap between such theses and the rejection of views such as computationalism and representationalism is not bridgeable (Adams 2010, Rupert 2009a, 2009b) a strategy that those critically sympathetic to embodied cognitive science have also made effective use of (e.g., Shapiro 2010, 2011). To this extent, the burden of proof currently lies squarely with proponents of embodied cognitive science who hold that the revolutionary promise of embodied cognition is real to show how those gaps can be bridged.

6.3 Embodied cognition and the extended mind thesis

One such putatively radical implication of embodied cognition is the Extended Mind Thesis, which says that an agent's mind and associated cognitive processing are neither skull-bound nor even body-bound, but extend into the agent's world. Unlike the Embodiment Thesis, this thesis arose via more explicitly philosophically-driven discussions—of functionalism (Harman 1988), of computationalism and individualism (R. Wilson 1994, 1995: ch.3–4), and of belief (Clark and Chalmers 1998). It thus bears a different kind of relationship to empirical work in cognitive science than does the idea of embodied cognition. Despite the legacies of these different histories, as we noted in Section 1, embodied cognition and extended cognition have recently come to be viewed as peas in the same pod, as variants of situated cognitive science.

The first point to draw attention to is that nothing in any of the three determinate forms of the Embodiment Thesis entails the extended mind thesis. Thus, the view that cognition is embodied (in some specific sense: constrained, distributed, or regulated) is compatible with the denial of the view that cognition is extended. Expressed in terms of the Body as Distributor thesis, perhaps cognitive processing is distributed by the body across neural and non-neural resources, but all of the relevant non-neural resources are contained within the boundaries of the body. We believe that this is the position occupied by the core of the embodied cognitive science community. (For example, Barsalou's recent [2008] review paper on “grounded cognition”, which completely omits mention of any the large philosophical literature on extended cognition, is indicative of this state of affairs.)

Second, many of the most influential defenses of the extended mind thesis appeal to considerations only tangentially related to the body—to computationalism and individualism (R. Wilson 1994), to distributed and group-level cognition (Hutchins 1995), to parity principles (Clark and Chalmers 1998), to realization (R. Wilson 2001, 2004: ch.5–6). For this reason, debate over those arguments and the extended view of the mind they putatively support have only recently become conjoined by advocates (R. Wilson 2010; A. Clark 2003, 2008) and critics (Adams and Aizawa 2008; Rupert 2009b) alike. This recent, joint consideration is of mutual benefit to discussions of both embodied and extended cognition.

Thus, and third, despite their independence, some have claimed that the most powerful arguments for one of these views also provide strong reasons to accept the other. For example, Andy Clark (2008) argues from the active embodiment of cognition to the extended mind thesis. Similarly, some of the most trenchant objections to one of these views would also appear also to serve as the basis for rejecting the other. For example, critics of the extended mind thesis, such as Adams and Aizawa (2008) and Rupert (2004, 2009b), have objected that those arguing for the thesis have confused or elided the distinction between external causes of cognition and external constituents of cognition. This charge of committing a “coupling-constitution fallacy” is also readily made against particular embodied cognition views, such as Alva Nöe's (2004) view that perceptual experience is constituted by sensorimotor abilities (see Prinz 2009; Aizawa 2007; Rupert 2006; Block 2005). While there may be relevant differences between embodied and extended cognition that imply that such arguments and objections do not transfer, there are at least default, parity considerations that put the burden of proof on those claiming those differences.

Fourth, there may be deeper reasons for thinking that embodied and extended cognition stand or fall together. Rupert (2009b), for example, has recently argued against both embodied and extended cognition in part by making a positive case for what he calls the cognitive systems view of the boundaries of cognition, and that this view suggests, together with our best empirical science, that cognition begins and ends in the brain. If Rupert is correct, then cognition is neither embodied nor extended because both views are incompatible with an independently-motivated account of the brain-bound nature of integrated cognitive architectures.

Conversely, in laying out a general conception of situated cognition as cognitive extension, Wilson and Clark (2009) claimed that “many forms of embodied cognition, properly understood, will turn out to involve just the kinds of cognitive extension that we articulate here” (p.56), a promissory note that one of us (R. Wilson 2010) has attempted to cash in offering the following explicit argument tying together embodied and extended cognition:

  1. The function of some visual processes is to guide action via visual information.
  2. A primary way to achieve that function is through the active embodiment of visual processing (à la Body as Distributor).
  3. Visual processes are actively embodied in this sense just if in their normal operation in natural environments, these processes are coupled with bodily activities so as to form an integrated system with functional gain.
  4. But visual processes that are actively embodied, in this sense, are also extended. Thus,
  5. Some visual processes, and the visual systems those processes physically constitute, are extended.

Clearly, as the premise that explicitly draws a connection between the Embodiment and Extended Mind theses, (4) is where this argument is likely to be scrutinized by those skeptical of the conclusion to this argument. Whether that can be done while accepting (1)–(3), however, is unclear and the kind of issue that requires further attention in this debate.

6.4 Agency, the self, and subjectivity

If the mind is not skull-bound but at least embodied, and perhaps even extended, then what view should we adopt of the self, subjectivity, and consciousness? The penultimate paragraph to Clark and Chalmers (1998) advocated the view that, to put it colloquially, where mind goes, the self follows: if the mind is extended, for example, so too is the self (see also A. Clark 2001, 2003). Since much of what matters to the identity of one's self is cognitive in nature, at least on traditional views of the self and personal identity, this “self-follows-mind” view seems a natural default.

If the boundaries of the self shift with those of the mind out from skull to body, or even from body to world, as the self-follows-mind view implies, then accepting embodied or extended cognition will have interesting implications concerning autonomy, sociality, personal identity, and responsibility. For example, it might be that in some cases interfering with someone's peripersonal space, the space close to the body, or even certain of one's belongings, will have a comparable moral significance as interfering with a person's body. And as Clark and Chalmers (1998) suggested in their final paragraph, certain forms of social activity might be reconceived as a kind of thought activity. The social distribution of human decision-making would also mitigate individual's responsibility for a transgression, thereby producing dramatic ramifications for our practices of attributing legal culpability. In effect, if situational forces and environmental contingences played a physically constitutive role in decision-making processes so as to become partial realizers of one's own behavior, as the so called ‘Frail Control Hypothesis’ seems to suggest (see Churchland and Suhler 2009 for critics to this view), then human beings would have little if any control over their actions and presumably no normative competence.

Against the self-follows-mind view, Wilson (2004: 141-143) has argued that even if one accepts that the mind is extended, there are reasons to resist the idea that the self is likewise extended. This resistance turns on precisely the kinds of implications indicated above, and their often radical, deeply counter-intuitive, and puzzling consequences. For example, if subjects of cognition (or agents, or individuals) are themselves distributed across brain, body, and world, then why should we punish just one bit of this individual, the bit inside the body, when it commits a crime? (Consider this a truncated reductio.) More generally, while agents as the subjects of cognition are not just a bundle of neural circuits and bodily experience, re-casting agency and subjectivity within the extended framework likely requires a far more comprehensive and somewhat uneasy reconceptualization of notions such as normative competence, freedom and control, and personal identity. Perhaps this simply tells us that much further exploration is needed concerning how embodied experiences in real-world contexts shape cognitive processing. Or perhaps it suggests that more conservative strategies should be employed to account for what the subjects of cognitive processing really are.

One such strategy is to appeal to the ready-made distinction between the subject or agent of cognition, which can be readily identified as being where the locus of control for a given cognitive system is, housed in the agent's body, and the cognitive systems in which cognitive processing is realized, which are often extended (R. Wilson 2004, ch.5–6). Such a distinction is put to antecedent use in making sense of extended biological systems, such as spiders and the webs they spin—these organisms are bounded, roughly speaking, by their cohesive, organic bodies, but still act in the world through the extended biological systems they construct (R. Wilson 2005, ch.1–4). Thus, an appeal to this distinction here is not ad hoc, and provides a principled basis for a more conservative, traditional view of agency and the self within an extended cognition framework.

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Acknowledgments

The authors would like to acknowledge detailed editorial feedback from SEP editors and reviewers for suggestions that led to improvements to this article, and to the following people who provided useful early feedback on what the article should cover: Fred Adams, Mike Anderson, Matt Barker, Paul Bloom, Andy Clark, Carl Craver, Terry Horgan, Edouard Machery, Bob McCauley, Alva Noé, Nico Orlandi, Tom Polger, Phil Robbins, Rob Rupert, and Larry Shapiro.

Copyright © 2011 by
Robert A. Wilson <rwilson.robert@gmail.com>
Lucia Foglia <lucia.foglia@mail.mcgill.ca>

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