# The Equivalence of Mass and Energy

*First published Wed Sep 12, 2001; substantive revision Mon Feb 6, 2012*

Einstein correctly described the equivalence of mass and energy as
“the most important upshot of the special theory of
relativity” (Einstein, 1919), for this result lies at the core of
modern physics. According to Einstein's famous equation
*E* = *mc*^{2}, the energy *E*
of a physical system is numerically equal to the product of its mass
*m* and the speed of light *c* squared. It is customary
to refer to this result as “the equivalence of mass and
energy,” or simply “mass-energy equivalence,” because
one can choose units in which *c* = 1, and hence *E* =
*m*.

The two main philosophical questions surrounding Einstein's equation
concern how we ought to understand the assertion that mass and energy
are in some sense *equivalent* and how we ought to understand
assertions concerning the convertibility of mass into energy (or vice
versa).

In this entry, we first discuss the physics
*E* = *mc*^{2} and its application
(Section 1).
In
Section 2,
we identify
six distinct, though related, philosophical interpretations of
Einstein's equation. We then discuss, in
Section 3,
the history of derivations of
*E* = *mc*^{2} and its philosophical
importance. Finally, in
Section 4
we give a selective
account of the empirical confirmation of Einstein's equation that
focuses on Cockcroft and Walton's (1932) first confirmation of
mass-energy equivalence and a very recent, and very accurate
confirmation by Rainville et al. (2005).

- 1. The Physics of
*E*=*mc*^{2} - 2. Philosophical Interpretations of
*E*=*mc*^{2} - 3. History of Derivations of Mass-Energy Equivalence
- 4. Experimental Verification of Mass-Energy Equivalence
- 5. Conclusion
- Bibliography
- Academic Tools
- Other Internet Resources
- Related Entries

## 1. The Physics of *E* = *mc*^{2}

In this section, we first present a minimal interpretation of
*E* = *mc*^{2}(in
Section 1.1).
The interpretation is minimal in the sense
that it makes as few metaphysical and ontological commitments as
possible. Furthermore, it is an interpretation with which nearly all
physicists and philosophers now agree. We then illustrate the physical
implications of Einstein's equation by considering three typical
examples of mass-energy equivalence at work (in
Section 1.2).
We discuss the philosophical interpretation of
*E* = *mc*^{2} separately below (in
Section 2).

### 1.1 A minimal interpretation of *E* = *mc*^{2}

To interpret *E* = *mc*^{2} we first
need to understand the meaning of the symbols *E* and
*m*. Unfortunately, these symbols are not used univocally by
physicists and philosophers. However, a common interpretation, which we
shall adopt for now, is that *E* represents the total energy of
a physical system *S*. The symbol *m* represents the
*relativistic* mass of *S*, which is the mass of
*S* as measured by an observer *O* that moves with a
constant velocity *v* relative to *S*.

In the special case where *O* and *S* are in a state
of relative rest the mass of *S* measured by *O* is
called the *rest-mass*, which one often designates
*m*_{o}. The rest-mass of *S* is a
measure of the inertia of *S*, i.e., of the tendency of
*S* to resist changes in velocity. Thus, the rest-mass of
*S* is simply its *inertial mass*. The rest-mass is
related to the relativistic mass by the equation:

m = m_{o}
γ(v), |
(1) |

where γ(*v*) = (1 −
*v*^{2}/*c*^{2})^{−½}
is the familiar Lorentz factor.

The value of the energy we obtain from Einstein's equation when
*S* and *O* are in a state of relative rest is often
called the *rest-energy* and is commonly designated
*E*_{o}. Significantly, Einstein often called
the rest-energy the “energy content
[*Energieinhalt*]” (1905b) of the body, as it is a measure
of all of the energy, including the potential energy, of the
constituents of *S*.

We can display the relationships between the various masses and energies we have discussed by writing down Einstein's equation in the following form:

E = m_{o}
γ(v) c^{2}, |
(2) |

where we have simply substituted the expression for the relativistic
mass from
(1)
into
*E* = *mc*^{2}. In the rest frame of
*S* the Lorentz factor is 1, because the velocity *v* of
*S* relative to its own rest frame is zero. Consequently, when
*O* and *S* are in a state of relative rest, equation
(2)
becomes:

E_{o} =
m_{o} c^{2}, |
(3) |

where we write *E*_{o} on the left-side
of
(3)
to indicate that we are referring to the
rest-energy of *S*.

We shall henceforth be referring exclusively to the result expressed
by
(3).
Consequently, we shall simply call
*E*_{o} “the energy of *S*”
and *m*_{o} “the mass of
*S*” unless we need to qualify these expressions either to
avoid ambiguity or to emphasize a particular feature of some result.
Furthermore, we shall follow the fairly common practice in the physics
literature of dropping the subscript “*o*” from
*E*_{o} and *m*_{o}
respectively. Thus, from now on, we will use *E* to designate
rest-energy and *m* to designate rest-mass.

The result Einstein originally derived in (1905b) is sometimes
called (e.g., by Baierlein, 2007) the “incremental” version
of
(3),
which we can now write using our recently
adopted conventions for the symbols *E* and *m* as:

ΔE =
Δm c^{2}, |
(4) |

where Δ*E* designates a change in the energy of
*S* and Δ*m* designates a change in the mass of
*S*. If we re-write
(4)
by
dividing both sides by *c*^{2}, we can see that
(4)
also says that if the energy of
*S* changes by an amount Δ*E*, its mass changes
concurrently by an amount Δ*m* =
Δ*E*/*c*^{2}.

### 1.2 Examples of *E* = *mc*^{2} at work

To illustrate the physical implications of
(4),
physicists tend to use two main types of
examples: (i) examples that examine the mass and energy of a single
body as an un-analyzed whole, and (ii) examples that examine the mass
and energy of a collection of objects, especially, atomic and
sub-atomic objects involved in collisions. The latter class of examples
is particularly useful for understanding mass-energy equivalence
because such examples deal with changes in energies and masses that are
detectable. Furthermore, such examples can emphasize the importance of
considering *all* the energy of a physical system, including the
potential energy of its constituents, in calculating the total mass
(and energy) of that system.

We begin by discussing the mass and energy of a single body (in Section 1.2.1). As a bridge to our discussion of collisions among sub-atomic objects (in Section 1.2.3), we first discuss the mass and energy of an ideal gas (in Section 1.2.2). In each case, we carefully identify the physical system under consideration, because a failure to do so can lead to interpretative confusion.

#### 1.2.1 Mass and energy of a single body

Let us first suppose that our physical system *S* consists of a
1 Kg. gold bar that absorbs enough heat energy so that its temperature
increases by 10°C. As a result of absorbing this much heat energy,
the inertial mass of the gold bar increases by 1.4
×10^{−14} Kg. The increase in mass is tiny, because
of the factor *c*^{2} that divides Δ*E*.
Similarly, if the gold bar radiates heat so that its temperature
decreases by 10°C, then its inertial mass will concurrently
decrease by 1.4 ×10^{−14} Kg.

In this example, the novel claim made by special relativity is that the inertial mass of a physical system changes when the system either absorbs or emits energy. No such change occurs according to pre-relativistic physics. In pre-relativistic physics, the inertial mass of the gold bar, i.e., the bar's tendency to resist changes in velocity, is the same at all temperatures.

Notice that in this example we have treated the boundaries of the gold bar as the boundaries of our physical system. Thus, as a physical system, the gold bar is not isolated, because it is interacting with its environment. To put it slightly differently, when the gold bar absorbs (or emits) energy its inertial mass increases (or decreases) concurrently, because there is a net energy flow into (or out of) the gold bar.

One can, of course, ask what happens “within” the gold
bar that leads to a change in its inertial mass as its energy content
changes. To answer this question, one has to examine the gold bar at
the atomic level. Clearly, we can perform such an analysis. Since
*E*=*mc*^{2} governs the behavior of *all*
physical systems, we can use it to explore more complex physical
systems, such as the system of atoms that constitutes the gold bar.

However, for simplicity, let us instead consider analogous changes to the mass and energy of an ideal gas. An ideal gas constitutes a simpler physical system than the gold bar, because in analyzing the former we do not need to take into account the potential energy of the constituents that make up the physical system (which is something we cannot ignore if we analyze the gold bar at the atomic level).

#### 1.2.2 Mass and energy of an ideal gas

Let us now suppose that our physical system *S* is an ideal
gas, i.e., a collection of idealized point-particles that move under
the action of no forces and collide with one another inside a massless
container. For such a system *S*, the inertial mass of
*S* is the sum of (i) the rest-masses of all the individual
particles that make up the gas and (ii) the sum of kinetic energies of
all the particles divided by *c*^{2}. There is no other
component that figures into the inertial mass of *S* since the
particles do not have any potential energy. Consequently, if the
average kinetic energy of the gas molecules decreases, say because the
gas cools, then the inertial mass of the gas sample decreases. In other
words, the tendency of the entire container of gas to resist changes to
velocity will decrease as the temperature of the gas decreases. Once
again, this is a novel prediction in special relativity that is absent
from pre-relativistic physics.

Einstein's equation also says, of course, that if there is a change to
the inertial mass of *S*, then there is a concurrent change to
the rest-energy of *S*. Thus, if we remove one molecule from
the gas sample, the rest-energy of the gas sample will diminish by an
amount equal to the sum of the molecule's kinetic energy *and*
the mass of the molecule times *c*^{2}. We can modify
our example to make it a bit more telling if we consider the gas
sample to be at a temperature of absolute zero, i.e., if we consider
the gas sample when all of its molecules are in a state of relative
rest. In this case, the rest-energy of *S* is simply the sum of
the masses of the molecules times *c*^{2}. Let us
suppose for simplicity that there are *n* molecules each of
rest-mass *m*. The rest-energy of *S* is then simply
*E* = *n·mc*^{2}. If we remove
one of the molecules from the gas, then the rest-energy decreases by
an amount Δ*E*=*mc*^{2} and the new
rest-energy of *S* becomes
*E*′ = (*n* −
1)*mc*^{2}.

Notice that throughout our discussion of the ideal gas we have
implicitly assumed that the boundaries of the system *S* are the
walls of the container. When we saw that the mass of *S*
decreases, it was because *S* radiates energy in the form of
heat. Note well that in this example *S* is *not* an
isolated system, because there is a net flow of energy out of
*S* and into its surrounding environment. Similarly, if the gas
sample were to absorb energy by absorbing, say, electromagnetic
radiation through its boundaries, its inertial mass would increase.

Let us now consider two such gas samples *S*_{1} and
*S*_{2} that are spaced some distance apart in a vacuum.
Let us further suppose that all of the energy Δ*E* emitted
by *S*_{1} is absorbed by *S*_{2}. In
this configuration, the mass *M*_{1} of
*S*_{1} will decrease by an amount
Δ*E*/*c*^{2}. As *S*_{2}
absorbs the amount of energy Δ*E*, its mass increases by
an equal amount Δ*E*/*c*^{2}. There is a
sense, then, in which it can be said that the radiation that
“carried” the energy Δ*E* from
*S*_{1} to *S*_{2} had the effect of
transferring some of the inertial mass from *S*_{1} to
*S*_{2}, or as Einstein put it “If the theory
agrees with the facts, then radiation transmits inertia between
emitting and absorbing bodies” (1905b, p. 174).

Let us now consider a different physical configuration. Suppose our
original gas sample *S* is enclosed within a larger container
*S*′. Let us further assume that the interior walls of
*S*′ are perfectly reflecting surfaces, and that the walls
of *S* are one way mirrors with perfectly reflecting exteriors.
What happens to the inertial mass of *S*′ as the gas in
*S* cools?

As the gas in *S* cools, some of the kinetic energy of its
molecules is changed into heat energy. The heat energy released by
*S* escapes into the interior of *S*′. However,
since we are assuming that the interior walls of *S*′ and
the exterior walls of *S* are completely reflective, the heat
energy does not escape *S*′. Thus, as the gas cools the
inertial mass of *S*′ remains constant. The change that
has occurred *within* *S*′ is that some of the
kinetic energy of the molecules within *S* became the heat
energy trapped outside of *S* and inside *S*′.
However, this has no effect on the mass of *S*′, which is
simply the sum of the masses of the molecules in *S* plus the
*total* energy contained within *S*′ divided by
*c*^{2}. It matters not how the energy is distributed
*within* *S*′. To put it slightly differently,
since we are treating *S*′ as an isolated system, its
inertial mass must remain constant (even according to special
relativity).

#### 1.2.3 Mass and energy in collisions of atomic and sub-atomic objects

Perhaps the most common examples used to illustrate Einstein's equation concern collisions among sub-atomic objects. For our purposes, it is safe to treat atomic and sub-atomic objects as particles involved in collisions where the total number of particles may or may not be conserved.

The bombardment of a Lithium nucleus by protons is a historically
significant and useful example for discussing mass-energy equivalence
in collisions where the number of particles is conserved. Cockcroft and
Walton (1932) were the first to observe the release of two
α-particles when a proton *p* collides with a
^{7}Li nucleus. The reaction is routinely symbolized as
follows:

p + ^{7}Li
→ α + α |
(5) |

That the number of particles is conserved in reaction
(5)
becomes clear when we recognize that the
^{7}Li nucleus consists of three protons and four neutrons and
that each α-particle consists of two protons and two
neutrons.

In reaction
(5),
the sum of the
rest-masses of the reactants (the proton and the ^{7}Li
nucleus) is *greater than* the sum of the rest-masses of the
products (the two α-particles). However, the total kinetic energy
of the reactants is *less than* the total kinetic energy of the
products. Cockcroft and Walton's experiment is routinely interpreted as
demonstrating that the difference in the rest-masses of the products
and reactants (times *c*^{2}) is equal to the difference
in the kinetic energies of the products and reactants (but see
Section 4
for further discussion of this experiment as a
confirmation of mass-energy equivalence).

Descriptions of collisions among sub-atomic particles such as the
one we have given above make it seem as though one must admit that mass
is *converted* into energy. However, influenced perhaps by the
widely-known discussion of mass-energy equivalence by Bondi and Spurgin
(1987), physicists now explain such reactions not as cases of mass
being converted into energy, but merely as cases where energy has
changed forms. Typically, in these types of reactions, the potential
energy that “contributes” to the rest-mass of one (or
possibly) more of the reactants is *transformed* in a
non-controversial way to the kinetic energy of the products. As
Baierlein (2007, p. 322) explains, in the case of the bombardment of
^{7}Li with protons and its subsequent decomposition into two
α-particles, the apparently “excess” kinetic energy
of the α-particles did not simply “appear” out of
nowhere. Instead, that energy was there all along as the potential
energy and kinetic energy of the nucleons. In other words, one can
explain the change in mass and energy in reaction
(5)
by saying (i) that the potential and kinetic
energies of the nucleons that make up the ^{7}Li nucleus
contribute to its rest-mass and (ii) that the vast amount of energy of
the α-particles was not “created” in the reaction, or
“converted” from mass, but was simply transformed from the
various forms of energy the nucleons possess. Of course, precisely what
it means to say that energy of the nucleons in this example can
“contribute” to the mass of the nucleus remains unclear at
this stage. We discuss this issue further in
Section 2.

Collisions among sub-atomic particles in which the number of
particles is not conserved are not quite so easily explained as merely
involving the re-arrangement of particles and re-distribution of
energy. The most extreme example of this sort, and one that is often
used in the physics literature, is pair annihilation. Consequently, let
us consider a collision between an electron
*e*^{−} and a positron *e*^{+},
which yields two photons (2γ). Symbolically, the reaction is
written as follows:

e^{−} + e^{+}
→ γ + γ |
(6) |

According to the currently accepted Standard Model of particle
physics, electrons and photons are both “fundamental
particles,” by which physicists mean that such particles have no
structure, i.e., such particles are not composed of other, smaller
particles. Furthermore, the photons that are the products in
reaction
(6)
have zero rest-mass. Thus, in
reaction
(6),
the rest-masses of the
incoming electron and positron seems to “disappear” and an
equivalent amount of energy “appears” as the energy of the
outgoing photons. Of course, Einstein's famous equation makes all of
the correct predictions concerning the relevant masses and energies
involved in reaction
(6).
So, for
example, the total energy of the two photons is equal to the sum of the
kinetic energies of the electron and positron *plus* the sum of
the rest-masses of the electron and positron divided by
*c*^{2}.

Finally, although mass and energy seem to “disappear”
and “appear” respectively when we focus on the individual
constituents of the physical system containing the incoming
electron-positron pair *and* the outgoing photons, the mass and
energy *of the entire system* remains the same throughout the
interaction. Before the collision, the rest-mass of the system is
simply the sum of the rest-masses of the electron and positron plus the
mass-equivalent of the total kinetic energy of the particles.
Consequently, the entire system (if we draw the boundary of the system
around the reactants and products—which is, of course, a spatial
and temporal boundary), has a non-zero rest-mass prior to the
collision. However, after the collision, the system, which now consists
of two photons moving in non-parallel directions, also has a non-zero
rest mass (see, for example, Taylor and Wheeler, 1992, p. 232). We
discuss how this type type of annihilation reaction is related to
interpretations of *E* = *mc*^{2} below
in
Section 2.

## 2. Philosophical interpretations of *E* = *mc*^{2}

There are three main philosophical questions concerning the
interpretation of *E* = *mc*^{2} that
have occupied philosophers and physicists:

- Are mass and energy the
*same*property of physical systems and is that what is meant by asserting that they are “equivalent”? - Is mass “converted” into energy in some physical interactions, and if so, what is the relevant sense of “conversion”?
- Does
*E*=*mc*^{2}have any ontological consequences, and if so, what are they?

Interpretations of mass-energy equivalence can be organized according to how they answer questions (1) and (2) above. As we will see (in Section 2.5), interpretations that answer question (3) affirmatively assume that the answer to question (1) is yes.

The only combination of answers to questions (1) and (2) that is inconsistent is to say that mass and energy are the same property of physical systems but that the conversion of mass into energy (or vice versa) is a genuine physical process. All the other three combinations of answers to questions (1) and (2) are viable options and have been held, at one time or another, by physicists or philosophers as indicated by the examples given in Table 1.

Table 1: Interpretations of mass-energy equivalence

ConversionNo ConversionSame PropertyX Torretti (1996), Eddington (1929) Different PropertiesRindler (1977)

(conversion ispossible)Bondi & Spurgin (1987)

In this section, we will describe the merits and demerits of each of
the interpretations in
Table 1.
Beyond these
interpretations, we will also discuss two other types of
interpretations of mass-energy equivalence that do not fit neatly in
Table 1.
First, we will discuss Lange's (2001,
2002) recent interpretation, which holds that only mass is a
*real* property of physical systems and that *we* convert
mass into energy when we shift the level at which we analyze physical
systems. Second, we will discuss two interpretations (one by Einstein
and Infeld, 1938 and the other by Zahar, 1989), which we will call
*ontological* interpretations, that attempt to answer question
(3) above affirmatively. However, we begin this section by addressing
what has formerly been a fairly common misconception concerning
mass-energy equivalence.

We wish to note that the general way in which we categorize and explain interpretations of mass-energy equivalence in this section first appeared in Flores (2005).

### 2.1 Misconceptions about *E* = *mc*^{2}

Although it is far less common today, one still sometimes hears of
Einstein's equation entailing that matter can be converted into energy.
Strictly speaking, this constitutes an elementary category mistake. In
relativistic physics, as in classical physics, mass and energy are both
regarded as *properties* of physical systems or properties of
the constituents of physical systems. If one wishes to talk about the
physical *stuff* that is the bearer of such properties, then one
typically talks about either “matter” or
“fields.” The distinction between “matter” and
“fields” in modern physics is itself rather subtle in no
small part because of the equivalence of mass and energy. Nevertheless,
we can assert that whatever sense of “conversion” seems
compelling between mass and energy, it will have to be a
“conversion” between *mass* and energy, and not
between *matter* and energy. Finally, our observation obtains
even in so-called “annihilation” reactions where the entire
mass of the incoming particles seems to “disappear” (see,
for example, Baierlein (p. 323, 2007). Of course, the older
terminology of “matter” and “anti-matter” does
not really help our philosophical understanding of mass-energy
equivalence and is perhaps partly to blame for misconceptions
surrounding *E* = *mc*^{2}.

### 2.2 Same-property interpretations of *E* = *mc*^{2}

The first interpretation we will consider answers “Yes”
to the first interpretative question posed above: mass and energy
*are* the same property of physical systems. Consequently, there
is no sense in which one of the properties is ever physically converted
into the other.

Philosophers such as Torretti (1996) and physicists such as
Eddington (1929) have adopted the same-property interpretation. For
example, Eddington states that “it seems very probable that mass
and energy are two ways of measuring what is essentially the same
thing, in the same sense that the parallax and distance of a star are
two ways of expressing the same property of location” (1929, p.
146). According to Eddington, the distinction between mass and energy
is artificial. We treat mass and energy as different properties of
physical systems because we routinely measure them using different
units. However, one can measure mass and energy using the same units by
choosing units in which *c* = 1, i.e., units in which distances
are measured in units of time (e.g., light-years). Once we do this,
Eddington claims, the distinction between mass and energy
disappears.

Like Eddington, Torretti points out that mass and energy
*seem* to be different properties because they are measured in
different units. Speaking against Bunge's (1967) view that their numerical equivalence does *not* entail that mass and energy “are the same thing,” Torretti explains:

If a kitchen refrigerator can extract mass from a given jug of water and transfer it by heat radiation or convection to the kitchen wall behind it, a trenchant metaphysical distinction between the mass and the energy of matter does seem far fetched (1996, p. 307, fn. 13).

For Torretti, the very existence of physical processes in which the emission of energy by an object is correlated with the decrease in the object's mass in accordance with Einstein's equation speaks strongly against the view that mass and energy are somehow distinct properties of physical systems. Torretti continues:

Of course, if lengths and times are measured with different, unrelated units, the ‘mass’... differs conceptually from the ‘energy.’ But this difference can be understood as a consquence of the convenient but deceitful act of the mind by which we abstract time and space from nature (1996, p. 307, fn. 13).

Thus, this footnote in his masterly *Relativity and Geometry* suggests that, for Torretti, we are misled into using different units for mass and energy merely because of how we perceive space and time. As we have seen, one can use the same units for mass and energy by adopting the convention Torretti himself uses of slecting units in which *c=1* (pp. 88–89). However, it may be useful to remember that merely using the same units for spatial and temporal intervals does not entail that space and time are treated “on a par” in special relativity; they are not, as is evident from the signature of the Minkwoski metric.

The main merit of Torretti's view is that it takes very seriously the unification of space and time effected by special relativity and so famously announced in the opening lines of Minkowski (1908). It is also consistent with how mass and energy are treated in general relativity.

Interpretations such as Torretti's and Eddington's draw no further ontological conclusions from mass-energy equivalence. For example, neither Eddington nor Torretti make any explicit claim concerning whether properties are best understood as universals, or whether one ought to be a realist about such properties. Finally, by saying that mass and energy are the same, these thinkers are suggesting that the denotation of the terms “mass” and “energy” is the same, though they recognize that the connotation of these terms is clearly different.

### 2.3 Different-properties interpretations of *E* = *mc*^{2}

As we have displayed in Table 1, interpretations of mass-energy equivalence that hold that mass and energy are different properties disagree concerning whether there is some physical process by which mass is converted into energy (or vice versa). Although superficially Lange's (2001, 2002) recent interpretation seems to fall in this category, as he certainly treats mass and energy as different properties, he differs from others in this category because Lange explicitly argues that only mass is a real property of physical systems. Consequently, we will discuss Lange's interpretation separately below (in Section 2.3.3).

We will begin with a discussion of Bondi and Spurgin's interpretation (in Section 2.3.1). They hold that mass and energy are distinct properties and that there is no such thing as the conversion of mass and energy. We will then discuss Rindler's interpretation (in Section 2.3.2). He maintains that mass and energy are different properties but that genuine conversions of mass and energy are at least permitted by mass-energy equivalence.

#### 2.3.1 Bondi and Spurgin's Different-Properties, No-Connversion Interpretation

Bondi and Spurgin's (1987) interpretation of mass-energy equivalence
has been influential especially among physicists concerned with physics
education. In an article where they complained about how students often
misunderstand Einstein's famous equation, Bondi and Spurgin argued that
Einstein's equation does not entail that mass and energy are the same
property any more than the equation
*m* = ρ*V* (where *m* is mass,
*V* is volume, and ρ is density) entails that mass and
volume are the same. Just as in the case of mass and volume, Bondi and
Spurgin argue, mass and energy have different *dimensions*.
Ultimately, this reduces to a disagreement with philosophers such as
Torretti who would argue that time, as a dimension, is no different
than any one of the spatial dimensions. Note well that this is not an
issue about the *units* we use for measuring mass (or
energy).

Everyone agrees that according to special relativity one can measure
spatial intervals in units of time. We can do this because of the
postulate of special relativity that states that the speed of light has
the same value in all inertial frames. If we perform what amounts to a
substitution of variables and take our spatial dimensions to be
*x _{n}** =

*x*/

_{n}*c*, where

*c*is the speed of light and

*n*= 1, 2, 3, we can select units in which

*c*= 1.

However, one can consistently use units in which *c* = 1 and
hold that there is nevertheless a fundamental distinction between space
and time as dimensions. On such a view, which is the view that Bondi
and Spurgin seem implicitly to be defending, while time is distinct
from any given spatial dimension, the contingent fact that *c*
has the same value in all inertial frames allows us to perform the
relevant substitution of variables. However, it does not follow from
this that we ought to treat time on a par with any spatial dimension,
or that we ought to treat the saptio-temporal interval as more
fundamental (in the way Torretti does).

In their influential article, Bondi and Spurgin then examine a variety of cases of purported conversions of mass and energy. In each case, they show that the purported conversion of mass and energy is best understood merely as a transformation of energy. In general, Bondi and Spurgin argue, whenever we encounter a purported conversion of mass and energy, we can always explain what is taking place by looking at the constituents of the physical system in the reaction and examining how energy is proportioned among the constituents before and after the reaction takes place.

As we have seen above, in the minimal interpretation of
*E* = *mc*^{2}
(Section 1.2.3),
explanations of purported
“conversions” along the lines suggested by Bondi and
Spurgin are now commonplace in the physics literature. These
explanations have the merit of emphasizing that in many cases the
mysteries of mass-energy equivalence do *not* concern one
physical property magically being transfigured into another. However,
the Bondi-Spurgin interpretation of mass-energy equivalence has the
demerit that it fails to address reactions such as the
electron-positron annihilation reaction
(6).
In such reactions, not only is the number
of particles not conserved, but *all* of the particles involved
are, by hypothesis, indivisible wholes. Thus, the energy liberated in
such reactions cannot be explained as resulting from a transformation
of the energy that was originally possessed by the constituents of the
reacting particles. Of course, Bondi and Spurgin may simply be hoping
that physics will reveal that particles such as electrons and positrons
are not indivisible wholes after all. Indeed, they may even use
annihilation reactions combined with their interpretation of
mass-energy equivalence to argue that it cannot be the case that such
particles are indivisible. Thus, we witness here explicitly just how
closely related interpretations concerning mass-energy equivalence can
be to views concerning the nature of matter.

The second demerit of the Bondi-Spurgin interpretation, which it
shares with all other interpretations of mass-energy equivalence that
hold that mass and energy are different properties, is that it remains
silent about a central feature of physical systems it uses in
explaining apparent conversions of mass and energy. In order to explain
purported conversions along the lines suggested by Bondi-Spurgin, one
must make the familiar assumption that the energy of the constituents
of a system, be it potential energy or kinetic energy,
“contributes” to the rest-mass of the system. Thus, for
example, in the bombardment and subsequent decomposition of
^{7}Li, i.e., reaction
(5),
Bondi
and Spurgin must explain the rest-mass of the ^{7}Li in the
familiar way, as arising from *both* the sum of the rest-masses
of the nucleons, and the mass-equivalents of their energies. However,
the Bondi-Spurgin interpretation offers no explanation concerning why
the energy of the constituents of a physical system, be it potential
energy or kinetic energy, manifest itself as part of the
*inertial* mass of the system as a whole.

As we shall see, Rindler's interpretation of mass-energy equivalence attempts to address the first demerit of the Bondi-Spurgin interpretation, while Lange's interpretation brings to the foreground that the energy of the constituents of a physical system “contributes” to that system's inertial mass.

#### 2.3.2 Rindler's Different-Properties, Conversion Interpretation

Rindler's interpretation of mass-energy equivalence is a slightly,
though importantly, modified version of the Bondi-Spurgin
interpretation. Rindler (for example, in 1977), agrees that there are
many purported conversions that are best understood as mere
transformations of one kind of energy into a different kind of energy.
Thus, Rindler too adopts the minimal interpretation of mass-energy
equivalence of, for example, the bombardment and subsequent
decomposition of ^{7}Li.

However, for Rindler, there is nothing within special relativity
itself that rules out the possibility that there exists fundamental,
structureless particles (i.e., particles that are “atomic”
in the philosophical sense of the term). If such particles exist, it is
possible according to Einstein's equation that some or all of the mass
of such particles “disappears” and an equivalent amount of
energy “appears” within the relevant physical system. Thus,
Rindler seems to be suggesting that we should confine our
interpretation of mass-energy equivalence to what we can deduce from
special relativity. Thus, we should hold that Einstein's equation at
least allows for genuine conversions of mass into energy, in the sense
that there *may* be cases where a certain amount of inertial
mass “disappears” from *within* a physical system
and a corresponding amount of energy “appears.”
Furthermore, in such cases we cannot explain the reaction as merely
involving a transformation of one kind of energy into another.

The merit of Rindler's interpretation is that it confines the interpretation of Einstein's equation to what we can validly infer from the postulates of special relativity. Unlike the interpretation proposed by Bondi and Spurgin, Rindler's interpretation makes no assumptions about the constitution of matter.

#### 2.3.3 Lange's One-Property, No-Conversion Interpretation

Lange (2001, 2002) has recently suggested a unique interpretation of
mass-energy equivalence. Lange begins his interpretation by arguing
that rest-mass is the only *real* property of physical systems.
This claim by itself suggests that there can be no such thing as a
physical process by which mass is converted into energy, for as Lange
asks “in what sense can mass be *converted* into energy
when mass and energy are not on a par in terms of their reality?”
(p. 227, 2002, emphasis in original). Lange then goes on to argue
that a careful analysis of purported conversions of mass-energy
equivalence reveals that there is no physical process by which mass is
ever converted into energy. Instead, Lange argues, the apparent
conversion of mass into energy (or vice versa) is an illusion that
arises when we shift our level of analysis in examining a physical
system.

Lange seems to use a familiar argument from the Lorentz invariance
of certain physical quantities to their “reality.” For
Lange, if a physical quantity is not Lorentz invariant, then it is not
real in the sense that it does not represent “the objective
facts, on which all inertial frames agree” (p. 209, 2002).
Thus Lange uses Lorentz invariance as a *necessary* condition
for the reality of a physical quantity. However, in several other
places, for example when Lange argues for the reality of the Minkowski
interval (p. 219, 2002) or when he argues for the reality of
rest-mass (p. 223, 2002), Lange implicitly uses Lorentz invariance
as a *sufficient* condition for the reality of a physical
quantity. However, if Lange adopts Lorentz-invariance as both a
necessary and sufficient condition for the reality of a physical
quantity, then he is committed to the view that rest-energy is real for
the very same reasons he is committed to the view that rest-mass is
real. Thus, Lange's original suggestion that there can be no physical
process of conversion between mass and energy because they have
different ontological status seems challenged.

As it happens, Lange's overall position is not seriously challenged
by the ontological status of rest-energy. Lange could easily grant that
rest-energy is a real property of physical systems and still argue (i)
that there is no such thing as a physical process of conversion between
mass and energy and (ii) that purported conversions result from
shifting levels of analysis when we examine a physical system. It is
his observations concerning (ii) that force us to face once again the
question of why the energy of the constituents of a physical system
manifests itself as the mass of the system. Lange's interpretation,
unfortunately, does not get us any closer to answering that question,
though as we shall suggest below, *no* interpretation of
mass-energy equivalence can do that (see
Section 3.2).

One of the main examples that Lange uses to present his
interpretation of mass-energy equivalence is the heating of an ideal
gas, which we have already considered above (see
Section 1.2.2).
He also considers examples involving
reactions among sub-atomic particles that, for our purposes, are very
similar in the relevant respects to the example we have discussed
concerning the bombardment and subsequent decomposition of a
^{7}Li nucleus. In both cases, Lange essentially adopts the
minimal interpretation we have discussed above. In the case of the
ideal gas, as we have seen, when the gas sample is heated and its
inertial mass concurrently increases, this increase in rest-mass is not
a result of the gas somehow being suddenly (or gradually) composed of
molecules that are themselves more massive. It is also not a result of
the gas suddenly (or gradually) containing more molecules. Instead, the
increased kinetic energy of the molecules of the gas
“contributes” to the increase in the gas sample's inertial
mass. Lange summarizes this feature of the increase in the gas sample's
inertial mass by saying:

... we have just seen that this “conversion” of energy into mass is not a real physical process at all.We“converted” energy into mass simply bychanging our perspectiveon the gas: shifting from initially treating it as many bodies to treating it as a single body [emphases in original] (p. 236, 2002)

Unfortunately, Lange's characterization threatens to leave readers
with the impression that if “we” had not shifted our
perspective in the analysis of the gas, no change to the inertial mass
of the gas sample would have ensued. Of course, it is unlikely that
Lange means this. Surely, Lange would agree that even if no human
beings are around to analyze a gas sample, the gas sample will respond
in any physical interaction differently as a whole *after* it
has absorbed some energy precisely because its inertial mass will have
increased.

The merits of Lange's view concerning the “conversion”
of mass-energy equivalence are essentially the same as the merits of
both the Bondi-Spurgin interpretation and Rindler's interpretation. In
all cases, these interpretations agree with the minimal interpretation
of *E* = *mc*^{2} that there are
important cases where we have now learned enough to assert confidently
that purported “conversions“ of mass and energy are merely
cases where energy of one kind is transformed into energy of another
kind. Aside from the comparatively minor issue concerning the
“reality” of rest-energy, the main demerit of Lange's view
is that it might potentially mislead unsuspecting readers.

### 2.4 Interpretations of *E* = *mc*^{2} and hypotheses concerning the nature of matter

The relationship between mass-energy equivalence and hypotheses
concerning the nature of matter is two-fold. First, as we have
suggested implicitly, some of the interpretations of mass-energy
equivalence seem to assume certain features of matter. Second, some
philosophers and physicists, notably Einstein and Infeld (1938) and
Zahar (1989), have argued that mass-energy equivalence has
*consequences* concerning the nature of matter. In this section,
we will discuss the first of these two relationships between
*E* = *mc*^{2} and hypotheses
concerning the nature of matter. We discuss the second relationship in
the next section
(Section 2.5).

To explain how some interpretations of mass-energy equivalence rest on assumptions concerning the nature of matter, we need first to recognize, as several authors have pointed out, e.g., Rindler (1977), Stachel and Torretti (1982), and Mermin and Feigenbaum (1990), that the relation one actually derives from the special relativity is:

E = (m
− q)c^{2} + K, |
(7) |

where *K* is merely an additive factor that fixes the
zero-point of energy and is conventionally set to zero and *q*
is also routinely set to zero. However, unlike the convention to set
*K* to zero, setting *q* = 0 involves a
hypothesis concerning the nature of matter, because it rules out the
possibility that there exists matter that has mass but which is such
that some of its mass can never be “converted” into
energy.

The same-property interpretation of mass-energy equivalence rests
squarely on the assumption that *q* = 0. Mass and
energy cannot be the same property if there exists matter that has mass
some of which cannot ever, under any conditions, be
“converted” into energy. However, one could argue that
although the same-property interpretation makes this assumption, it is
not an *unjustified* assumption. Currently, physicists do not
have any evidence that there exists matter for which *q* is not
equal to zero. Nevertheless, it seems important, from a philosophical
point of view, to recognize that the same-property interpretation
depends not only on what one can derive from the postulates of special
relativity, but also on evidence from “outside” this
theory.

Interpretations of *E* = *mc*^{2}
that hold that mass and energy are distinct properties of physical
systems need not, of course, assume that *q* is different from
zero. Such interpretations can simply leave the value of *q* to
be determined empirically, for as we have seen such interpretations
argue for treating mass and energy as distinct properties on different
grounds. Nevertheless, the Bondi-Spurgin interpretation does seem to
adopt implicitly a hypothesis concerning the nature of matter.

According to Bondi and Spurgin, all purported conversions of mass
and energy are cases where one type of energy is transformed into
another kind of energy. This in turn assumes that we can, in all cases,
understand a reaction by examining the constituents of physical
systems. If we focus on reactions involving sub-atomic particles, for
example, Bondi and Spurgin seem to assume that we can always explain
such reactions by examining the internal structure of sub-atomic
particles. However, if we ever find good evidence to support the view
that some particles have *no* internal structure, as it now
seems to be the case with electrons for example, then we either have to
give up the Bondi-Spurgin interpretation or use the interpretation
itself to argue that such seemingly structureless particles actually do
contain an internal structure. Thus, it seems that the Bondi-Spurgin
interpretation assumes something like the infinite divisibility of
matter, which is clearly a hypothesis that lies “outside”
special relativity.

### 2.5 Ontological interpretations of *E* = *mc*^{2}

Einstein and Infeld (1938) and Zahar (1989) have both argued that
*E* = *mc*^{2} has ontological
consequences. Both of the Einstein-Infeld and Zahar interpretations
begin by adopting the *same-property* interpretation of
*E* = *mc*^{2}. Thus, according to both
interpretations, mass and energy are the same properties of physical
systems. Furthermore, both the Einstein-Infeld and Zahar
interpretations use a rudimentary distinction between
“matter” and “fields.” According to this
somewhat dated distinction, classical physics includes two fundamental
substances: matter, by which one means ponderable material stuff, and
fields, by which one means physical fields such as a the
electromagnetic field. For both Einstein and Infeld and Zahar, matter
and fields in classical physics are distinguished by the properties
they bear. Matter has both mass and energy, whereas fields only have
energy. However, since the equivalence of mass and energy entails that
mass and energy are really the same physical property after all, say
Einstein and Infeld and Zahar, one can no longer distinguish between
matter and fields, as both now have both mass *and* energy.

Although both Einstein and Infeld and Zahar use the same basic argument, they reach slightly different conclusions. Zahar argues that mass-energy equivalence entails that the fundamental stuff of physics is a sort of “I-know-not-what” that can manifest itself as either matter or field. Einstein and Infeld, on the other hand, in places seem to argue that we can infer that the fundamental stuff of physics is fields. In other places, however, Einstein and Infeld seem a bit more cautious and suggest only that one can construct a physics with only fields in its ontology.

The demerits of either ontological interpretation of mass-energy
equivalence are that it rests upon the *same-property*
interpretation of *E* = *mc*^{2}. As we
have discussed above (see
Section 2.4),
while one
*can* adopt the *same-property* interpretation, to do so
one must make additional assumptions concerning the nature of matter.
Furthermore, the ontological interpretation rests on what nowadays
seems like a rather crude distinction between “matter” and
“fields.” To be sure, mass-energy equivalence has figured
prominently in physicists' conception of matter in no small part
because it does open up the door to a description of what we ordinarily
regard as ponderable matter in terms of fields, since the energy of the
field at one level can manifest itself as mass one level up. However,
the inference from mass-energy equivalence to the fundamental ontology
of modern physics seems far more subtle than either Enstein and Infeld
or Zahar suggest.

## 3. History of Derivations of Mass-Energy Equivalence

Einstein first derived mass-energy equivalence from the principles of special relativity in a small article titled “Does the Inertia of a Body Depend Upon Its Energy Content?” (1905b). This derivation, along with others that followed soon after (e.g., Planck (1906), Von Laue (1911)), uses Maxwell's theory of electromagnetism. (See Section 3.1.) However, as Einstein later observed (1935), mass-energy equivalence is a result that should be independent of any theory that describes a specific physical interaction. This is the main reason that led physicists to search for “purely dynamical” derivations, i.e., derivations that invoke only mechanical concepts such as “energy” and “momentum”, and the principles that govern them. (See Section 3.2)

### 3.1 Derivations of *E* = *mc*^{2} that Use Maxwell's Theory

Einstein's original derivation of mass-energy equivalence is the
best known in this group. Einstein begins with the following
thought-experiment: a body at rest (in some inertial frame) emits two
pulses of light of equal energy in opposite directions. Einstein then
analyzes this “act of emission” from another inertial
frame, which is in a state of uniform motion relative to the first. In
this analysis, Einstein uses Maxwell's theory of electromagnetism to
calculate the physical properties of the light pulses (such as their
intensity) in the second inertial frame. By comparing the two
descriptions of the “act of emission”, Einstein arrives at
his celebrated result: “the mass of a body is a measure of its
energy-content; if the energy changes by *L*, the mass changes
in the same sense by *L*/9 × 10^{20}, the energy
being measured in ergs, and the mass in grammes” (1905b,
p. 71). A similar derivation using the same thought experiment but
appealing to the Doppler effect was given by Langevin (1913) (see the
discussion of the inertia of energy in Fox (1965, p. 8)).

Some philosophers and historians of science claim that Einstein's
first derivation is fallacious. For example, in *The Concept of
Mass*, Jammer says: “It is a curious incident in the history
of scientific thought that Einstein's own derivation of the formula
*E* = *mc*^{2}, as published in his
article in *Annalen der Physik*, was basically fallacious. . .
the result of a *petitio principii*, the conclusion
begging the question” (Jammer, 1961, p. 177). According to
Jammer, Einstein implicitly assumes what he is trying to prove, viz.,
that if a body emits an amount of energy *L*, its inertial mass
will decrease by an amount
Δ*m* = *L*/*c*^{2}. Jammer
also accuses Einstein of assuming the expression for the relativistic
kinetic energy of a body. If Einstein made these assumptions, he would
be guilty of begging the question. Recently, however, Stachel and
Torretti (1982) have shown convincingly that Einstein's (1905b)
argument is sound. They note that Einstein indeed derives the
expression for the kinetic energy of an “electron” (i.e., a
structureless particle with a net charge) in his earlier (1905a) paper.
However, Einstein nowhere uses this expression in the (1905b)
derivation of mass-energy equivalence. Stachel and Torretti also show
that Einstein's critics overlook two key moves that are sufficient to
make Einstein's derivation sound, since one need not assume that
Δ*m* = *L*/*c*^{2}.

Einstein's further conclusion that “the mass of a body is a
measure of its energy content” (1905b, p. 71) does not,
strictly speaking, follow from his argument. As Torretti (1996) and
other philosophers and physicists have observed, Einstein's (1905b)
argument allows for the possibility that once a body's energy store has
been entirely used up (and subtracted from the mass using the
mass-energy equivalence relation) the remainder is not zero. In other
words, it is only an hypothesis in Einstein's (1905b) argument, and
indeed in all derivations of *E* = *mc*^{2}
in special relativity, that no “exotic matter” exists that
is *not* convertible into energy (see Ehlers, Rindler, Penrose,
(1965) for a discussion of this point). However, particle-antiparticle
anihilation experiments in atomic physics, which were first observed
decades after 1905, strongly support “Einstein's dauntless
extrapolation” (Torretti, 1996, p. 112).

### 3.2 Purely Dynamical Derivations of *E* = *mc*^{2}

Purely dynamical derivations of *E* =
*mc*^{2} typically proceed by analyzing an inelastic
collision from the point of view of two inertial frames in a state of
relative motion (the centre-of-mass frame, and an inertial frame moving
with a relative velocity *v*). One of the first papers to appear
following this approach is Perrin's (1932). According to Rindler and
Penrose (1965), Perrin's derivation was based largely on Langevin's
“elegant” lectures, which were delivered at the College de
France in Zurich around 1922. Einstein himself gave a purely dynamical
derivation (Einstein, 1935), though he nowhere mentions either Langevin
or Perrin. The most comprehensive derivation of this sort was given by
Ehlers, Rindler and Penrose (1965). More recently, a purely dynamical
version of Einstein's original (1905b) thought experiment, where the
particles that are emitted are not photons, has been given by Mermin
and Feigenbaum (1990).

Derivations in this group are distinctive because they demonstrate
that mass-energy equivalence is a consequence of the changes to the
structure of spacetime brought about by special relativity. The
relationship between mass and energy is independent of Maxwell's theory
or any other theory that describes a specific physical interaction. We
can get a glimpse of this by noting that to derive
*E* = *mc*^{2} by analyzing a
collision, one must first define relativistic momentum
(**p**_{rel}) and relativistic kinetic energy
(*T*_{rel}), since one cannot use the old Newtonian
notions of momentum and kinetic energy. In Einstein's own purely
dynamical derivation (1935), more than half of the paper is devoted to
finding the mathematical expressions that define
**p**_{rel} and *T*_{rel}. This
much work is required to arrive at these expressions for two reasons.
First, the changes to the structure of spacetime must be incorporated
into the definitions of the relativistic quantities. Second,
**p**_{rel} and *T*_{rel} must be
defined so that they reduce to their Newtonian counterparts in the
appropriate limit. This last requirement ensures, in effect, that
special relativity will inherit the empirical success of Newtonian
physics. Once the definitions of **p**_{rel} and
*T*_{rel} are obtained, the derivation of mass-energy
equivalence is straight-forward. (For a more detailed discussion of
Einstein's (1935), see Flores, (1998).)

*why*the rest-mass of the constituents of a physical system contributes to that system's rest-energy, or why the energy of the constituents contributes to the rest-mass of the system. Given the changes to the structure of spacetime imposed by special relativity, and given the definitions of dynamical quantities one adopts (for well-motivated reasons), one can certainly derive mass-energy equivalence from special relativity. Such a derivation, however, can only show

*that*mass is equivalent to energy in the sense we have struggled to elaborate above. Such a derivation, in other words, is a good candidate for what Kitcher familiarly calls a “top-down” explanation. For further discussion of this point, see Flores (1999, 2005).

## 4. Experimental Verification of Mass-Energy Equivalence

Cockcroft and Walton (1932) are routinely credited with the first
experimental verification of mass-energy equivalence. Cockcroft and
Walton examined a variety of reactions where different atomic nulcei
are bombarded by protons. They focussed their attention primarily on
the bombardment of ^{7}Li by protons (i.e., reaction
(5)
above).

In their famous paper, Cockcroft and Walton noted that the sum of
the rest-masses of the proton and the Lithium nucleus (i.e., the
reactants) was 1.0072 + 7.0104 = 8.0176 amu. However, the sum of the
rest-masses of the two α-particles (i.e., the products) was
8.0022 amu. Thus, it seems as if an amount of mass of 0.0154 amu has
“disappeared” from the reactants. Cockcroft and Walton also
observed that the total energy (in the reference frame in which the
^{7}Li nucleus is at rest) for the reactants was 125 KeV.
However, the total kinetic energy of the α-particles was observed
to be 17.2 MeV. Thus, it seems as if an amount of energy of
approximately 17 MeV has “appeared” in the reaction.

Implicitly referring to the equivalence of mass and energy,
Cockcroft and Walton then simply assert that a mass 0.0154 amu
“is equivalent to an energy liberation of (14.3 ± 2.7)
×10^{6} Volts” (p. 236). They then implicitly
suggest that this inferred value for the kinetic energy of the two
resulting α-particles is consistent with the *observed*
value for the kinetic energy of the α-particles. Cockcroft and
Walton conclude that “the observed energies of the
α-particles are consistent with our hypothesis”
(pp. 236–237). The hypothesis they set out to test, however, is
not mass-energy equivalence, but rather than when a ^{7}Li
nucleus is bombarded with protons, the result is two
α-particles.

As Stuewer (1993) has suggested, Cockcroft and Walton *use*
mass-energy equivalence to confirm their hypothesis about what happens
when ^{7}Li is bombarded by protons. Hence, it does not seem we
ought to regard this experiment as a confirmation of
*E* = *mc*^{2}. However, if we take
some of the other evidence that Cockcroft and Walton provide concerning
the identification of the products in reaction
(5)
as sufficient to establish that the products are
indeed α-particles, then we can interpret this experiment as a
confirmation of mass-energy equivalence, which is how this experiment
is often reported in the physics literature.

Much more recently, Rainville et al. (2005) have published the
results of what they call “A direct test of
*E* = *mc*^{2}.” Their
experiments test mass-energy equivalence “directly” by
comparing the difference in the rest-masses in a neutron capture
reaction with the energy of the emitted γ-rays. Specifically,
Rainville et al. examine two reactions, one involving neutron capture
by Sulphur (S), the other involving neutron capture by Silicon
(Si):

n + ^{32}S
→
^{33}S + γ |
(8) |

n + ^{28}Si
→
^{29}Si + γ |
(9) |

In these reactions, when the nucleus of an atom (in this case either
^{32}S or ^{28}Si) captures the neutron, a new isotope
is created in an excited state. In returning to its ground state, the
isotope emits a γ-ray. According to Einstein's equation, the
difference in the rest-masses of the neutron plus nucleus, on the one
hand, and the new isotope in its ground state on the other hand, should
be equal to the energy of the emitted photon. Thus, Rainville et al.
test
Δ*E* = Δ*m**c*^{2}
by making very accurate measurements of the rest-mass difference and
the frequency, and hence energy, of the emitted photon. Rainville et
al. report that their measurements show that Einstein's equation
obtains to an accuracy of at least 0.00004%.

## 5. Conclusion

In this entry, we have presented a minimal interpretation of mass-energy equivalence widely held by both physicists and philosophers. We have also canvassed a variety of philosophical interpretations of mass-energy equivalence some of which go beyond the minimal interpretation with which we began. Along the way, we have presented the merits and demerits of each interpretation. We have also presented a brief history of derivations of mass-energy equivalence to emphasize that the equivalence of mass and energy is a direct result to changes to the structure of spacetime imposed by special relativity. Finally, we have briefly and rather selectively discussed the empirical confirmation of mass-energy equivalence.

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Einstein, Albert: philosophy of science | ontological commitment | space and time: inertial frames