# Relative Identity

*First published Mon Apr 22, 2002; substantive revision Mon Nov 5, 2007*

Identity is often said to be a relation each thing bears to itself and
to no other thing (e.g., Zalabardo 2000). This characterization is
clearly circular ("no *other* thing") and paradoxical too,
unless the notion of "each thing" is qualified. More satisfactory
(though partial) characterizations are available and the idea that such
a relation of absolute identity exists is commonplace. Some, however,
deny that a relation of absolute identity exists. Identity, they say,
is relative: It is possible for objects *x* and *y* to be
the same *F* and yet *not* the same *G*, (where
*F* and *G* are predicates representing kinds of things
(apples, ships, passengers) rather than merely properties of things
(colors, shapes)). In such a case ‘same’ cannot mean
absolute identity. For example, the same person might be two different
passengers, since one person may be counted twice as a passenger. If to
say that *x* and *y* are the same person is to say that
*x* and *y* are persons and are (absolutely) identical,
and to say that *x* and *y* are different passengers is
to say that *x* and *y* are passengers and are
(absolutely) distinct, we have a contradiction. Others maintain that
while there are such cases of "relative identity," there is also such a
thing as absolute identity. According to this view, identity comes in
two forms: trivial or absolute and nontrivial or relative (Gupta
1980). These maverick views present a serious challenge to the
received, absolutist doctrine of identity. In the first place, cases
such as the passenger/person case are more difficult to dismiss than
might be supposed (but see below, §3). Secondly, the standard view
of identity is troubled by many persistent puzzles and problems, some
of recent and some of ancient origin. The relative identity alternative
sheds considerable light on these problems even if it does not promise
a resolution of them all.

A word about notation. In what follows, lower case italic letters
‘*x*’, ‘*y*’, etc., are used
informally either as variables (bound or free) or as (place-holders
for) individual constants. The context should make clear which usage is
in play. Occasionally, for emphasis or in deference to logical
tradition, other expressions for individual constants are employed.
Also, the use/mention distinction is not strictly observed; but again
the context should resolve any ambiguity.

## 1. The Standard Account of Identity

[Note: The following material is somewhat technical. The reader may
wish to casually review it now and return to it as needed, especially
in connection with §5. The propositions **Ref**,
**LL**, **Ref**′,
**LL**′, **NI**, and
**ND** are identified in the present section and are
referred to as such in the rest of the entry.]

Identity may be formalized in the language *L* of classical
first-order logic (FOL) by selecting a two place predicate of
*L*, rewriting it as ‘=’, and adopting the universal
closures of the following two postulates:

Ref:x=x

LL:x=y→ [φ(x) → φ(y)],

where the formula φ(*x*) is like the formula
φ(*y*) except for having occurrences of *x* at some
or all of the places φ(*y*) has occurrences of *y*
(see Enderton 2000, for a precise definition). Ref is the principle of
the *reflexivity of identity* and LL (*Leibniz’ Law*) is
the principle of the *indiscernibility of identicals*. It says
in effect that identical objects cannot differ in any respect. The
other characteristic properties of identity, *symmetry*
(*x* = *y* → *y* = *x*), and
*transitivity* (*x* = *y* & *y* =
*z* → *x* = *z*), may be deduced from Ref and
LL. Any relation that is reflexive, transitive, and symmetric is called
an ‘equivalence relation’. Thus, identity is an equivalence
relation satisfying LL. But not all equivalence relations satisfy LL.
For example, the relation *x and y are the same size* is an
equivalence relation that does not satisfy LL (with respect to a rich
language such as English).

Let *E* be an equivalence relation defined on a set
*A*. For *x* in *A*, [*x*] is the set of
all *y* in *A* such that *E*(*x*,
*y*); this is *the equivalence class of x determined by
E*. The equivalence relation *E* divides the set *A*
into mutually exclusive equivalence classes whose union is *A*.
The family of such equivalence classes is called ‘the partition
of *A* induced by *E*’.

Now let *A* be a set and define the relation
*I*(*A*,*x*,*y*) as follows: For *x*
and *y* in *A*,
*I*(*A*,*x*,*y*) if and only if for each
subset *X* of *A*, either *x* and *y* are
both elements of *X* or neither is an element of *X*.
This definition is equivalent to the more usual one identifying the
identity relation on a set *A* with the set of ordered pairs of
the form <*x*,*x*> for *x* in *A*.
The present definition proves more helpful in what follows.

Suppose for the moment that we do not assign any special
interpretation to the identity symbol. We treat it like any other two
place predicate. Let *M* be a structure for *L* and
assume that Ref and LL are true in *M*. Call the relation
defined in *M* by the conjunction of Ref and LL
‘indiscernibility’ (see Enderton 2000, for the definition
of definability in a structure). There are three important points to
note about the relationship between indiscernibility, and the relation
*I*(*A*,*x*,*y*). First, indiscernibility
need not be the relation *I*(*A*,*x*,*y*)
(where *A* is the domain of the structure). It might be an
equivalence relation *E* having the property that for some
elements *u*,*v*, of the domain,
*E*(*u*,*v*) holds, although
*I*(*A*,*u*,*v*) fails. Secondly, there is
no way to "correct for" this possibility. There is no sentence or set
of sentences that could be added to the list beginning with Ref and LL
that would guarantee that indiscernibility coincides with
*I*(*A*,*x*,*y*). This fact is usually
expressed by saying that identity is not a first-order or "elementary"
relation. (For a proof, see Hodges 1983.) However, in a language such
as set theory (as usually interpreted) or second-order logic, in which
there is a quantifier ‘all *X*’ permitting
quantification over all subsets of a given set,
*I*(*A*,*x*,*y*) is definable.

Third, given any structure *M* for *L* in which Ref and
LL are true, there is a corresponding structure *QM*, the
‘quotient structure’ determined by *M*, in which
indiscernibility *does* coincide with
*I*(*A*,*x*,*y*). *QM* is obtained
in roughly the following way: Let the elements of *QM* be the
equivalence classes [*x*], for elements *x* of
*M* determined by indiscernibility in *M*. If *F*
is a one-place predicate true in *M* of some object *x*
in *M*, then define *F* to be true of [*x*] in
*QM*, and similarly for many-place predicates and constants. It
can then be shown that any sentence true in *M* is true in
*QM*, and vice versa. The existence of quotient structures
makes it possible to treat the identity symbol as a logical constant
interpreted in terms of *I**(A*,*x*,*y*).
There is in fact in general no other way to *guarantee* that
Ref and LL will hold in every structure. (As Quine (1970) points out,
however, a *finite* language will always contain a predicate
satisfying Ref and LL in any structure; cf. Hodges 1983.) The
alternative, however, is to view FOL with Ref and LL (FOL^{=})
as a proper theory in whose models (structures in which Ref and LL
hold) there will be an equivalence relation *E* such that if
*E*(*x*,*y*) holds, then *x* and
*y* will be indiscernible with respect to the *defined*
subsets of the domain. But we cannot in general assume that every
subset of the domain is definable. If the domain is infinite,
*L* runs out of defining formulas long before the domain runs
out of subsets. Nonetheless, a strong metatheorem asserts that any
set of formulas that has a model, has a countable (finite or
denumerable) model. This means that the difference between
indiscernibility and *I**(A*,*x*,*y*) is
minimized at least to the extent that, for a sufficiently rich
language such as *L*, the valid formulas concerning
indiscernibility (i.e., the formulas true in every model of what is
termed below ‘the pure *L*-theory with identity’)
coincide with the valid formulas concerning
*I*(*A*,*x*,*y*). (See Epstein 2001 for a
sketch of a proof of this fact.) This is not to say, however, that
there isn't a significant difference between identity *qua*
indiscernibility and identity *qua*
*I*(*A*,*x*,*y*) (see below). Both points
of view — that FOL^{=} is a proper theory and that it is
a logic — may be found in the literature (Quine 1970). The
latter is the more usual view and it will count here as part of the
standard account of identity.

Assume that *L*′ is some fragment of *L*
containing a subset of the predicate symbols of *L* and the
identity symbol. Let *M* be a structure for *L*′
and suppose that some identity statement *a = b* (where
*a* and *b* are individual constants) is true in
*M*, and that Ref and LL are true in *M*. Now expand
*M* to a structure *M*′ for a richer language
— perhaps *L* itself. That is, assume we add some
predicates to *L*′ and interpret them as usual in
*M* to obtain an expansion *M*′ of
*M*. Assume that Ref and LL are true in *M*′ and
that the interpretation of the terms *a* and *b* remains
the same. Is *a = b* true in *M*′? That
depends. If the identity symbol is treated as a logical constant, the
answer is "yes." But if it is treated as a non-logical symbol, then it
can happen that *a = b* is false in *M*′. The
indiscernibility relation defined by the identity symbol in *M*
may differ from the one it defines in *M*′; and in
particular, the latter may be more "fine-grained" than the former. In
this sense, if identity is treated as a logical constant, identity is
*not* "language relative;" whereas if identity is treated as a
non-logical notion, it *is* language relative. For this reason
we can say that, treated as a logical constant, identity is
‘unrestricted’. For example, let *L*′ be a
fragment of *L* containing only the identity symbol and a
single one-place predicate symbol; and suppose that the identity
symbol is treated as non-logical. The formula

∀x∀y∀z(x=y∨x = z∨y = z)

is then true in any structure for *L*′ in which Ref and
LL are true. The reason is that the unique one-place predicate of
*L*′ divides the domain of a structure into those objects
it satisfies and those it does not. Hence, at least two of any group of
three objects will be indiscernible. On the other hand, if the identity
symbol is interpreted as *I*(*A*,*x*,*y*),
this formula is false in any structure for *L*′ with three
or more elements.

If we do wish to view identity as a non-logical notion, then the
phenomenon of language relativity suggests that it is best not to
formalize identity using a single identity predicate ‘=’.
Instead, we have the following picture: We begin with a language
*L* and define an *L-theory with identity* to be a
theory whose logical axioms are those of FOL and which is such that
*L* contains a two-place predicate
*E*_{L} satisfying the non-logical axiom
Ref’ and the non-logical axiom schema LL′:

Ref′:E_{L}(x,x)

LL′:E_{L}(x,y) → (φ(x) → φ(y)).

The *pure* *L*-theory with identity is the
*L*-theory whose sole non-logical axiom is Ref’ and whose sole
non-logical axiom schema is LL′.

Now the phenomenon of language relativity can be described more
accurately as follows. Let *L*_{1} be a sublanguage of
*L*_{2} and assume that *T*_{1} and
*T*_{2} are, respectively, the pure
*L*_{1}-theory with identity and the pure
*L*_{2}-theory with identity. Let *M*_{1}
and *M*_{2} be models of *T*_{1} and
*T*_{2}, respectively, having the same domain. Assume
that *a* and *b* are individual constants having the same
interpretation in *M*_{1} and *M*_{2}.
Let *E*_{1} and *E*_{2} be the identity
symbols of *L*_{1} and *L*_{2}. It can
happen that *E*_{1}(*a*,*b*) is true in
*M*_{1} but
*E*_{2}(*a*,*b*) is false in
*M*_{2}. We can then say, with Geach (1967; see §4)
and others, that the self-same objects indiscernible according to one
theory may be discernible according to another.

There are two further philosophically significant features of the
standard account of identity. First, identity is a *necessary*
relation: If *a* and *b* are rigid terms (terms whose
reference does not vary with respect to parameters such as time or
possible world) then

NI: Ifa = bis true, then it is necessarily true.

Assuming certain modal principles, the necessity of distinctness (ND) follows from NI.

ND: Ifa≠bis true, then it is necessarily true.

Note that the necessary truth of *a = b* does not imply the
necessary existence of objects *a* or *b*. We may assume
that what a rigid term *a* denotes at a possible world (or
moment of time) *w* need not exist in *w*. Secondly, we
do not ordinarily say things of the form "*x* is the same as
*y*". Instead, we say "*x* and *y* are the same
person" or "*x* and *y* are the same book". The standard
view is that the identity component of such statements is just
‘*x* is the same as *y*’. For example,
according to the standard view, ‘*x* and *y* are
the same person’ reduces to ‘*x* and *y* are
persons and *x* is the same as *y*’, where the
second conjunct may be formalized as in FOL^{=}.

## 2. Paradoxes of Identity

The concept of identity, simple and settled though it may seem (as characterized by the standard account), gives rise to a great deal of philosophical perplexity. A few (by no means all) of the salient problems are outlined below. These are presented in the form of paradoxes — arguments from apparently undeniable premises to obviously unacceptable conclusions. The aim here is to make clear just what options are available to one who would stick close to the standard account. Often (but not always) little or no defense or critique of any particular option is offered. In the next section, we shall see what the relative identity alternative offers by comparison.

### 2.1 The Paradox of Change

The most fundamental puzzle about identity is the problem of change.
Suppose we have two photographs of a dog, Oscar. In one, *A*,
Oscar is a puppy, in the other, *B*, he is old and gray muzzled.
Yet we hold that he is the same dog, in, it appears, direct violation
of LL. More explicitly, *B* is a photograph of an old dog with a
gray muzzle; *A* is a photograph of a young dog without a gray
muzzle. *A* and *B* are photographs of the same dog. But
according to LL, if the dog in *B* has a property (e.g., having
a gray muzzle) that the dog in *A* lacks, then *A* and
*B* are *not* photographs of the same dog. Contradiction.

Various solutions have been proposed. The most popular are the
following two: (1) Simple properties such as having or lacking a gray
muzzle are actually relations to times. Oscar has the property of
lacking a gray muzzle *at time t* and the property of having a
gray muzzle at (a later) *t*′; but there is no
incompatibility, since being thus and so related to time *t* and
not being thus and so related to time *t*′ are compatible
conditions, and hence change involves no violation of LL. (2) Oscar is
an object that is extended in time as well as space. The puppy Oscar
and old gray muzzled Oscar are distinct temporal parts or stages of the
whole temporally extended Oscar. The photograph of Oscar as a puppy is
therefore not a photograph of Oscar at all. There cannot be still
photographs of Oscar.

These proposals may seem plausible, and indeed most philosophers subscribe to one or other of them. The most common objections — that on the temporal parts account, objects are not "wholly present" at any given time, and that on the relations-to-times account, seemingly simply properties of objects, such as Oscar having a gray muzzle, are complicated relations — do little more than affirm what their targets deny. Yet the objections are an attempt to give voice to a strong intuition concerning our experience as creatures existing in time. Both (1) and (2) treat time and change from a "God's eye" point of view. (1) presupposes time laid out "all at once", so to speak, and similarly for (2). But we experience no such thing. Instead, while we are prepared to wait to see the whole of a baseball game we are watching, we are not prepared to wait to see the whole of painting we are viewing..

### 2.2 Chrysippus' Paradox

The following paradox — a variation of the paradox of change
— raises some new questions. It is due to the Stoic philosopher
Chrysippus (c.280 B.C.-c.206 B.C.) and has recently been resurrected
by Michael Burke (Burke 1994). Suppose that at some point
*t*′ in the future poor Oscar loses his tail. Consider
the proper part of Oscar, as he is now (at *t*), consisting of
the whole of Oscar minus his tail. Call this object
‘ Oscar-minus ‘. Chrysippus wished to know
which of these objects — Oscar or Oscar-minus — survives
at *t*′. According to the standard account of identity,
Oscar and Oscar-minus are distinct at *t*. and hence, by ND,
they are distinct at *t*′. (Intuitively, Oscar and
Oscar-minus are distinct at *t*′ since Oscar has a
property at *t*′ that Oscar-minus lacks, namely, the
property of having had a tail at *t*. Notice that this argument
involves a tacit appeal to ND — or NI, depending on how you look
at it). Hence, if both survive, we have a case of two distinct
physical objects occupying exactly the same space at the same
time. Assuming that is impossible, and assuming, as commonsense
demands, that Oscar survives the loss of his tail, it follows that
Oscar-minus does not survive. This conclusion is paradoxical because
it appears that *nothing happens* to Oscar-minus in the
interval between *t* and *t*′ that would cause it
to perish.

One extreme option is to deny that there are such things as
Oscar-minus. Undetached proper parts of objects don't exist (van
Inwagen 1981). Another is to claim that the parts of an object are
essential to it (Chisholm 1973). A third, less extreme, option is to
insist that objects of *different* kinds, e.g., a clay statue
and the piece of clay it is composed of, *can* occupy the same
space at the same time, but objects of the same kind, e.g., two
statues, cannot (Wiggins 1968; for refinements, see Oderberg
1996). A fourth option is to claim that Oscar and Oscar-minus are two
distinct, temporally extended objects — a dog part, Oscar-minus,
and a dog, Oscar — that overlap at *t*′. Temporal
parts of distinct objects can occupy the same space at the same
time.

### 2.3 The Paradox of 101 Dalmatians

(This paradox is also known as the paradox of 1001 cats; Geach 1980,
Lewis 1993): Focus on Oscar and Oscar-minus at *t —*
before Oscar loses his tail. Is Oscar-minus a dog? When Oscar loses
his tail the resulting creature is certainly a dog. Why then should we
deny that Oscar-minus is a dog? We saw above that one possible
response to Chrysippus' paradox was to claim that Oscar-minus does not
exist at *t*′. But even if we adopt this view, how does
it follow that Oscar-minus, existing as it does at *t*, is not
a dog? Yet if Oscar-minus is a dog, then, given the standard account
of identity, there are two dogs where we would normally count only
one. In fact, for each of Oscar's hairs, of which there are at least
101, there is a proper part of Oscar — Oscar minus a hair
— which is just as much a dog as Oscar-minus. There are then at
least 101 dogs (and in fact many more) where we would count only
one. Some claim that things such as dogs are "maximal." No proper part
of a dog is a dog (Burke 1993). One might conclude as much simply to
avoid multiplying the number of dogs populating the space reserved for
Oscar alone. But the maximality principle may seem to be independently
justified as well. When Oscar barks, do all these different dogs bark
in unison? If a thing is a dog, shouldn't it be capable of independent
action? Yet Oscar-minus cannot act independently of
Oscar. Nevertheless, David Lewis (1993) has suggested a reason for
counting Oscar-minus and all the 101 dog parts that differ (in various
different ways) from one another and Oscar by a hair, as dogs, and in
fact as Dalmatians (Oscar is a Dalmatian). Lewis invokes Unger's
(1980) "problem of the many." Oscar sheds continuously but
gradually. His hairs loosen and then dislodge, some such remaining
still in place. Hence, within Oscar's compass at any given time there
are congeries of Dalmatian parts sooner or later to become definitely
Dalmatians; some in a day, some in a second, or a split second. It
seems arbitrary to proclaim a Dalmatian part that is a split second
away from becoming definitely a Dalmatian, a Dalmatian, while denying
that one a day away is a Dalmatian. As Lewis puts it, we must either
deny that the "many" are Dalmatians, or we must deny that the
Dalmatians are many. Lewis endorses proposals of both types but seems
to favor one of the latter type according to which the Dalmatians are
not many but rather "almost one" In any case, the standard account of
identity seems unable on its own to handle the paradox of 101
Dalmatians. It requires that we either deny that Oscar minus a hair is
a dog — and a Dalmatian — or else that we must affirm that
there is a multiplicity of Dalmatians, all but one of which is
incapable of independent action and all of which bark in unison no
more loudly than Oscar barks alone.

### 2.4 The Paradox of Constitution

Suppose that on day 1 Jones purchases a piece of clay *c* and
fashions it into a statue *s*_{1}. On day 2, Jones
destroys *s*_{1}, but not *c*, by squeezing
*s*_{1} into a ball and fashions a new statue
*s*_{2} out of *c*. On day 3, Jones removes a
part of *s*_{2}, discards it, and replaces it using a
new piece of clay, thereby destroying *c* and replacing it by a
new piece of clay, *c*′. Presumably,
*s*_{2} survives this change. Now what is the
relationship between the pieces of clay and the statues they
"constitute?" A natural answer is: identity. On day 1, *c* is
identical to *s*_{1} and on day 2, *c* is
identical to *s*_{2}. On day 3, *s*_{2}
is identical to *c*′. But this conclusion directly
contradicts NI. If, on day 1, *c* is (identical to)
*s*_{1}, then it follows, given NI, that on day 2,
*s*_{1} is *s*_{2} (since *c* is
identical to *s*_{2} on day 2) and hence that
*s*_{1} exists on day 2, which it does not. By a similar
argument, on day 3, *c* is *c*′ (since
*s*_{2} is identical to both) and so *c* exists
on day 3, which it does not. We might conclude, then, that either
constitution is not identity or that NI is false. Neither conclusion is
wholly welcome. Once we adopt the standard account less NI, the latter
principle follows directly from the assumption that individual
variables and constants in quantified modal logic are to be handled
exactly as they are in first-order logic. And if constitution is not
identity, and yet statues, as well as pieces of clay, are physical
objects (and what else would they be?), then we are again forced to
affirm that distinct physical objects may occupy (exactly) the same
space at the same time. The statue *s*_{1} and the piece
of clay *c* occupy the same space on day 1. Even if this is
deemed possible (Wiggins 1980), it is unparsimonious. The standard
account is thus *prima facie* incompatible with the natural idea
that constitution is identity.

Philosophers have not argued by direct appeal to NI or ND.
Typically, (e.g., Gibbard 1975, Noonan 1993, Johnston 1992),
arguments that *c* and *s*_{1} are not identical
run as follows: *c* exists prior to the existence of
*s*_{1} and hence the two are not identical. Again,
*s*_{1} possesses the property of being such that it
will be destroyed by being squeezed into a ball, but *c* does
not possess this property (*c* will be squeezed into a ball but
it will not thereby be destroyed). So again the two are not identical.
Further, whatever the future in fact brings, *c might* have been
squeezed into a ball and not destroyed. Since that is not true of
*s*_{1}, the two are not identical. On a careful
analysis, however, each of these arguments can be seen to rely on NI or
ND, *provided one adopts the standard account of modal/temporal
predicates.* This last proviso suggests an interesting way out for
one who adheres to the standard account of identity but who also holds
that constitution is identity (see below).

Some philosophers find it important or at least expedient to frame
the issue in terms of the case of a statue *s* and piece of clay
*c* that coincide throughout their entire existence. We bring
both *c* and *s* into existence by joining two other
pieces of clay together, or we do something else that guarantees total
coincidence. It seems that total coincidence is supposed to lend
plausibility to the claim that, in such a case at least, constitution
is identity (and hence NI is false — Gibbard 1975). It may do so,
psychologically, but not logically. The same sorts of arguments against
the thesis that constitution is identity apply in such a case. For
example, *s* may be admired for its aesthetic traits, even long
after it ceases to exist, but this need not be true of *c*. And
*s* has the property, which *c* lacks, of being destroyed
if squeezed into a ball. Those who defend the thesis that constitution
is identity need to defend it in the general case of partial
coincidence; and those who attack the thesis do so with arguments that
work equal well against both total and partial coincidence. The
assumption that *s* and *c* are totally coincident is
therefore inessential.

The doctrine of temporal parts offers only limited help. The
statement that *c* is identical to *s*_{1}on day
1 but identical to *s*_{2} on day 2 can be construed to
mean that *c* is a temporally extended object whose day 1 stage
is identical to *s*_{1} and whose day 2 stage is
identical to *s*_{2}. Since the two stages are not
identical, NI does not apply. Similarly, we can regard
*s*_{2} as a temporally extended object that overlaps
*c* on day 2 and *c*′ on day 3. But unless temporal
parts theorists are prepared to defend a doctrine of modally extended
objects — objects extended through possible worlds analogous to
objects extended in time, there remains a problem. s_{2}
*might* have been made of a different piece of clay, as is in
fact the case on day 3. That is, it is logically possible for
*s*_{2} to fail to coincide with the day 2 stage of
*c*. But it is not logically possible for the day 2 stage of
*c* to fail to coincide with itself.

Lewis recognizes this difficulty and proposes to deal with it by
appealing to his counterpart theory (Lewis 1971, 1986, and 1993).
Different concepts, e.g., *statue* and *piece of clay*
are associated with different counterpart relations and hence with
different criteria of trans-world identity. This has the effect of
rendering modal predicates "Abelardian" (Noonan 1991, 1993). The
property determined by a modal predicate may be affected by the subject
term of a sentence containing the predicate. The subject term denotes
an object belonging to this or that kind or sort. But different kinds
or sorts may determine different properties (or different counterpart
relations). In particular, the properties determined by the predicate
‘might not have coincided with *c*_{2}’
(where *c*_{2} names the day 2 stage of *c*) in
the following sentences,

(a)s_{2}might not have coincided withc_{2},(b)

c_{2}might not have coincided withc_{2},

are *different*, and hence (a) and (b) are compatible, even
assuming that *s*_{2} and *c*_{2} are
identical. (It should be emphasized that counterpart theory is not the
only means of obtaining Abelardian predicates. See Noonan 1991.)

The upshot seems to be that that the advocate of the standard account of identity must maintain either that constitution is not identity or that modal predicates are Abelardian. The latter option may be the fruitful one, since for one thing it seems to have applications that go beyond the issue of constitution.

### 2.5 The Ship of Theseus Paradox

(See Plutarch, *Life of Theseus*.) Imagine a wooden ship
restored by replacing all its planks and beams (and other parts) by new
ones. Plutarch reports that such a ship was "… a model for the
philosophers with respect to the disputed arguments … some of them
saying it remained the same, some of them saying it did not remain the
same" (cf. Rea 1995). Hobbes added the catch that the old parts are
reassembled to create another ship exactly like the original. Both the
restored ship and the reassembled one appear to qualify equally to be
the original. In the one case, the original is "remodeled", in the
other, it is reassembled. Yet the two resulting ships are clearly not
the same ship.

Some have proposed that in a case like this our ordinary "criteria of identity" fail us. The process of dismantling and reassembling usually preserves identity, as does the process of part replacement (otherwise no soldier could be issued just one rifle and body shops would function as manufacturers). But in this case the two processes produce conflicting results: We get two ships, one of which is the same ship as the original, by one set of criteria, and the other is the original ship by another set of criteria. There is a similar conflict of criteria in the case of personal identity: Brain duplication scenarios (Wiggins 1967, Parfit 1984) suggest that it is logically possible for one person to split into two competitors, each with equal claim to be the original person. We take it for granted that brain duplication will preserve the psychological properties normally relevant to reidentifying persons and we also take it for granted that the original brain continues to embody these properties even after it is duplicated. In this sense there is a conflict of criteria. Such a case of "fission" gives us two distinct embodiments of these properties.

Perhaps we should conclude that identity is not what matters.
Instead, what matters is some *other* relation, but one that
accounts as readily as identity for such facts as that the owner of the
original ship would be entitled to both the restored version and the
reassembled one. For the case of personal identity, Parfit (1984)
develops such a response in detail. A related reaction would be to
claim that if both competitors have equal claim to be the original,
then neither *is* the original. If, however, one competitor is
inferior, then the other wins the day and counts as the original. It
seems that on this view certain contingencies can establish or falsify
identity claims. That conflicts with NI. Suppose that *w* is a
possible world in which no ship is assembled from the discarded parts
of the remodeled ship. In this world, then, the remodeled ship is the
original. By NI, the restored ship and the original are identical in
the actual world, contrary to the claim of the "best candidate"
doctrine (which says that neither the remodeled nor the reassembled
ship is the original). There are, however, more sophisticated "best
candidate" theories that are not vulnerable to this objection (Nozick
1982).

Some are convinced that the remodeled ship has the best claim to be
the original, since it exhibits a greater degree of spatio-temporal
continuity with the original (Wiggins 1967). But it is unclear why the
intuition that identity is preserved by spatio-temporal continuity
should take precedence over the intuition that identity is preserved in
the process of dismantlement and reassembly. Furthermore, certain
versions of the ship of Theseus problem do not involve the feature that
one of the ships competing to be the original possesses a greater
degree of spatio-temporal continuity with the original than does the
other (see below). Others are equally convinced that identity is
*not* preserved by total part replacement. This view is often
suggested blindly, as a stab in the dark, but there is in fact an
interesting argument in its favor. Kripke (1980) argues that a table
made out of a particular hunk of wood *could not* have been made
out of a (totally) different hunk of wood. His reasoning is this:
Suppose that in the actual world a table *T* is made out of a
hunk of wood *H*; and suppose that there is a possible world
*w* in which this very table, *T*, is made out of a
different hunk of wood, *H*′. Then assuming that
*H* and *H*′ are completely unrelated (for example,
they do not overlap), so that making a table out of the one is not
somehow dependent upon making a table out of the other, there is
another possible world *w*′ in which *T*, as in the
actual world, is made out of *H*, and another table
*T*′, exactly similar to *T*, is made out of
*H*′. Since *T* and *T*′ are not
identical in *w*′, it follows by ND that the table made
out of *H*′ in *w* is not *T*. Note,
however, that the argument assumes that the table made out of
*H*′ in *w*′ is the same table as the table
made out of *H*′ in *w*.

Kripke's reasoning can be applied to the present case (Kripke and
others might dispute this claim; see below). Let *w* be a
possible world just like the actual world in that *O*, the
original ship, is manufactured exactly as it is in the actual world. In
*w*, however, another ship, *S*′, exactly similar
to *O*, is simultaneously built out of precisely the same parts
that *S*, the remodeled ship, is built out of in the actual
world. Since *S*′ and *O* are clearly different
ships in *w*, it follows by ND that *O* and *S*
are not the same ship in the actual world. Note again that the argument
assumes that *S* and *S*′ are the same ship, but it
seems quite a stretch to deny that. Nevertheless, some have done so.
Carter,1987 claims (in effect) that *S* and *S*′
are not identical, but his argument simply *assumes* that
*O* and *S* are the same ship. Alternatively, one might
view the (Kripkean) argument as showing only that while *S* is
the same ship as *O* in the actual world, *S* (that is,
*S*′) is not the same ship as *O* in *w*.
But this is not an option for one who adheres to the standard account
and hence adheres to ND. In defending this view, however, Gallois,
(1986, 1988) suggests a weakened notion of rigid designation and a
corresponding weakened formulation of ND. (See Carter 1987 for
criticism of Gallois' proposals. See also Chandler 1975 for a
precursor of Gallois' argument.)

If we grant that *O* and *S* cannot be the same ship,
we seem to have a solution to the ship of Theseus paradox. By the
Kripkean argument, only the reassembled ship has any claim to being the
original ship, *O*. But this success is short lived. For we are
left with the following additional paradox: Suppose that *S*
eventuates from *O* by replacing one part of *O* one day
at a time. There seems to be widespread agreement that replacing just
one part of a thing by a new exactly similar part preserves the
identity of the thing. If so, then, by the transitivity of identity,
*O* and *S* must be the same ship. It follows that either
the Kripkean argument is incorrect, or replacement of even a single
part (or small portion) does not preserve identity (a view known as
"mereological essentialism;" Chisholm 1973).

As indicated, Kripke denies that his argument (for the necessity of
origin) applies to the case of change over time: "The question whether
the table could have *changed* into ice is irrelevant here"
(1972, 1980). So the question whether *O* could change into
*S* is supposedly "irrelevant." But Kripke does not give a
reason for this claim, and if cases of trans-temporal identity and
trans-world identity differ markedly in relevant respects — repsects
relevant to Kripke's argument for the necessity of origin, it is not
obvious what they are. (But see Forbes 1985, and Lewis 1986, for
discussion.) The argument above was simply that *O* and
*S* cannot be the same ship since there is a possible world in
which they differ. If this argument is incorrect it is no doubt because
there are conclusive reasons showing that *S* and
*S*′ differ. Even so, such reasons are clearly not
"irrelevant." One may suspect that, if applied to the trans-temporal
case, Kripke's reasoning will yield an argument for mereological
essentialism. Indeed, a trans-world counterpart of such an argument has
been tried (Chandler 1976, though Chandler views his argument somewhat
differently). In its effect, this argument does not differ essentially
from the "paradox" sketched in the previous paragraph (which may well
be viewed as an argument for mereological essentialism). Subsequent
commentators, e.g., Salmon, (1979) and Chandler (1975, 1976), do not
seem to take Kripke's admonition of irrelevance seriously.

In any case, there *is* a close connection between the two
issues (the ship of Theseus problem and the question of the necessity
of origin). This can be seen (though it may already be clear) by
considering a modified version of the ship of Theseus problem. Suppose
that when *O* is built, another ship *O*′, exactly
like *O*, is also built. Suppose that *O*′ never
sets sail, but instead is used as a kind of graphic repair manual and
parts repository for *O*. Over time, planks are removed from
*O*′ and used to replace corresponding planks of
*O*. The result is a ship *S* made wholly of planks from
*O*′ and standing (in the end), we may suppose, in exactly
the place *O*′ has always stood. Now do *O* and
*O*′ have equal claim to be *S*? And can we then
declare that neither is *S*? Not according to the Kripkean line
of thought. It looks for all the world as though the process of
"remodeling" *O* is really just an elaborate means of
dismantling and reassembling *O*′. And if
*O*′ and *S* are the same ship, then since
*O* and *O*′ are distinct, *O* and
*S* cannot be the same ship.

This argument is vulnerable to the following two important criticisms: First, it conflicts with the common sense principle that (1) the material of an object can be totally replenished or replaced without affecting its identity (Salmon 1979); and secondly, as mentioned, it conflicts with the additional common sense principle that (2) replacement by a single part or small portion preserves identity. These objections may seem to provide sufficient grounds for rejecting the Kripkean argument and perhaps restricting the application of Kripke's original argument for the necessity of origin (Noonan 1983). There is, however, a rather striking problem with (2), and it is uncleear whether the conflict between (1) and the Kripkean argument should be resolved in favor of the former.

The problem with (2) is this. Pick a simple sort of objects, say,
shoes, or better, sandals. Suppose *A* and *B* are two
exactly similar sandals, one of which (*A*) is brand new and the
other (*B*) is worn out. Each consists of a top strap and a
sole, nothing more. If *B*'s worn strap is replaced by
*A*'s new one, (2) dictates that the resulting sandal is
*B* "refurbished." In fact, if the parts of *A* and
*B* are simply exchanged, (2) dictates that that the sandal with
the new parts, *A*′, is *B* and the sandal with the
old parts, *B*′, is *A*. It follows by ND that
*A* and *A*′ and *B* and *B*′
are distinct. This is surely the wrong result. The intuition that
*A* and *A*′ are the same sandal is very strong;
and the process of exchanging the parts of *A* and *B*
seems to amount to nothing more than the dismantling and reassembling
of each. This example is no different in principle than the more
elaborate trans-world cases discussed by Chisholm (1967), Chandler
(1976), Salmon (1979), or Gupta (1980). (One who claims that
*A* and *A*′ differ in that *A*′ comes
into existence after *A*, does not have much to go on.
*A* cannot be supposed to persist after *A*′ comes
into existence. We do not end up with two *new* sandals and one
old one. Why then couldn't it be *A* itself that reappears at
the later time?)

### 2.6 Church's Paradox

The following paradox — perhaps the ultimate paradox of identity
— derives from an argument of Church (1982). Suppose Pierre
thinks that London and Londres are different cities, but of course
doesn't think that London is different from London, or that Londres is
different from Londres. Assuming that proper names lack Fregean
senses, we can apply LL to get the result that London and Londres
*are* distinct. We have here an argument that, given the
standard account of identity, merely *thinking* that *x*
and *y* are distinct is enough to make them so. There are, of
course, a number of ways around this conclusion without abandoning the
standard account of identity. Church himself saw the argument (his
version of it) as demonstrating the inadequacy of Russellian
intensional logic — in which variables and constants operate as
they do in extensional logic, i.e., unequipped with senses. (For
another reaction, see Salmon 1986.) But there are strong arguments
against the view that names (or variables) have senses (Kripke
1980). In light of these arguments, Church's argument may be viewed as
posing yet another paradox of identity.

The general form of Church's argument has been exploited by others
to reach further puzzling conclusions. For example, it has been used to
show that there can be no such thing as vague or "indeterminate"
identity (Evans 1978; and for discussion, Parsons 2000). For
*x* is not vaguely identical to *x*; hence, if *x*
is assumed to be vaguely identical to *y*, then by LL,
*x* and *y* are (absolutely) distinct. As it stands,
Evans' argument shows at best that vaguely identical objects must be
absolutely distinct, not that there is no such thing as vague identity.
But some have tried to amend the argument to get Evans' conclusion
(Parsons 2000; and see the entry on vagueness). In any case, it is
useful to see the connection between Evans' argument and Church's. If,
for example, ‘vaguely identical’ is taken to mean
‘thought to be identical’, then the two arguments collapse
into one another. Church's line of argument would seem to lead
ultimately to the extreme antirealist position that any perceived
difference among objects is a real difference. If one resolves not to
attempt to escape the clutches of LL by some clever dodge — by
disallowing straightforward quantifying-in, for example, as with the
doctrine of Abelardian predicates — one comes quickly to the absurd
conclusion that no statement of the form *x* = *y*, where
the terms are different, or are just different tokens of the same type,
can be true. Yet it might just be that the fault lies not in ourselves,
but in LL.

## 3. Relative Identity

The fundamental claim of relative identity-the claim the various
versions of the idea have in common-is that, as it seems in the
passenger/person case, it can and does happen that *x* and
*y* are the same *F* and (yet) *x* and *y*
are not the same G. Now it is usually supposed that if *x* and
*y* are the same *F* (G etc.), then that implies that
*x* and *y* are *F*s (*G*s, etc.) If so,
then the above schema is trivially satisfied by the case in which
*x* and *y* are the same person but *x*
(*y*) is not a passenger at all. But let us resolve to use the
phrase ‘*x* and *y* are different
*G*s’ to mean ‘*x* and *y* are
*G*s and *x* and *y* are not the same
*G*’. Then the nontrivial core claim about relative
identity is that the following may well be true:

RI:xandyare the sameFbutxandyare differentGs.

RI is a very interesting thesis. It seems to yield dramatically
simple solutions to (at least some of) the puzzles about identity. We
appear to be in a position to assert that young Oscar and old Oscar are
the same dog but nonetheless distinct "temporary" objects; that Oscar
and Oscar-minus are the same dog but different dog parts; that the same
piece of clay can be now (identical to) one statue and now another;
that London and Londres are the same city but different "objects of
thought," and so forth. Doubts develop quickly, however. Either the
*same dog* relation satisfies LL or it does not. If it does not,
it is unclear why it should be taken to be a relation of
*identity*. But if it satisfies LL, then it follows, given that
Oscar and Oscar-minus are different dog parts, that Oscar-minus is not
the same dog part as Oscar-minus. Furthermore, assuming that the
*same dog part* relation *is* reflexive, it follows from
the assumption that Oscar-minus and Oscar-minus are the same dog (and
that LL is in force), that Oscar and Oscar-minus are indeed the same
dog part, which in fact they are not.

It may seem, then, that RI is simply incoherent. These arguments,
however, are a bit too quick. On analysis, they show only that the
following three conditions form an inconsistent triad: (1) RI is true
(for some fixed predicates *F* and *G*). (2) Identity
relations are equivalence relations. (3) The relation *x and y are
the same F* figuring in (1) satisfies LL. For suppose that the
relation *x and y are the same G*, figuring in (1), is reflexive
and that *x* is a *G*. Then *x* is the same
*G* as *x*. But according to (1), *x* and
*y* are not the same *G*s; hence, according to (3), it is
not the case that *x* and *y* are the same *F*;
yet (1) asserts otherwise. Now, most relative identity theorists
maintain that while identity relations are equivalence relations, they
do not in general satisfy LL. However, according to at least one
analysis of the passenger/person case (and others), the *same
person* relation satisfies LL but the *same passenger*
relation is not straightforwardly an equivalence relation (Gupta
1980). It should be clear though that this view is incompatible with
the principle of the *identity of indiscernibles*: If *x*
and *y* are different passengers, there must be, by the latter
principle, some property *x* possesses that *y* does not.
Hence if the *same person* relation satisfies LL, it follows
that *x* and *y* are *not* the same person. For
the remainder we will assume that identity relations are equivalence
relations. Given this assumption, (and assuming that the underlying
propositional logic is classical — cf. Parsons 2000) RI and LL are
incompatible in the sense that within the framework of a single fixed
language for which LL is defined, RI and LL are incompatible.

Yet the advocate of relative identity cannot simply reject any form
of LL. There are true and indispensable instances of LL: If *x*
and *y* are the same dog, then, surely, if *x* is a
Dalmatian, so is *y*. The problem is that of formulating and
motivating *restricted* forms of LL that are nonetheless strong
enough to bear the burden of identity claims. There has been little
systematic work done in this direction, crucial though it is to the
relative identity project. (See Deutsch 1997 for discussion of this
issue.) There are, however, equivalence relations that do satisfy
restricted forms of LL. These are sometimes called ‘congruence
relations’ and they turn up frequently in mathematics. For
example, say that integers *n* and *m* are congruent if
their difference *n* − *m* is a multiple of 3. This
relation preserves multiplication and addition, but not every property.
The numbers 2 and 11 are thus congruent but 2 is even and 11 is not.
There are also non-mathematical congruencies. For example, the relation
*x and y are traveling at the same speed* preserves certain
properties and not others. If objects *x* and *y* are
traveling at the same speed and *x* is traveling faster than
*z*, the same is true of *y*. Such similarity relations
satisfy restricted forms of LL. In fact, any equivalence relation
satisfies a certain minimal form of LL (see below).

There are strong and weak versions of RI. The weak version says that
RI has some (in fact, many) true instances but also that there are
predicates *F* such that if *x* and *y* are the
same *F*, then, for any equivalence relation, *E*,
whatsoever (whether or not an identity relation),
*E*(*x*,*y*). This last condition implies that the
relation *x and y are the same F* satisfies LL. The relation
*P* defined so that *P*(*x*,*y*) if and
only if *H*(*x*) and *H*(*y*), where
*H* is some predicate, is an equivalence relation. Hence, if
*H* holds of *x* but not of *y*, there is an
equivalence relation (namely, *P*(*x*,*y*)) that
fails to hold of *x* and *y*. If we add that in this
instance ‘*x* and *y* are the same
*F*’ is to be interpreted in terms of the relation
*I*(*A*,*x*,*y*), then the weak version of
RI says that there is such a thing as relative identity and such a
thing as absolute identity as well. The strong version, by contrast,
says that there are (many) true instances of RI but there is no such
thing as absolute identity. It is difficult to know what to make of the
latter claim. Taken literally, it is false. The notion of unrestricted
identity (in the sense of ‘unrestricted’ explained in
§1) is demonstrably coherent. We return to this matter in §5
.

The puzzles about identity outlined in §2 (and there are many
others, as well as many variants of these) put considerable pressure on
the standard account. A theory of identity that allows for instances of
RI is an attractive alternative (see below §4). But there is a
certain kind of example of RI, frequently discussed in the literature,
that has given relative identity something of a bad name. The
passenger/person example is a case in point. The noun
‘passenger’ is derived from the corresponding relational
expression ‘passenger in (on) …’. A passenger is
someone who is a passenger in some vehicle (on some flight, etc.).
Similarly, a father is man who fathers someone or who is the father of
someone. This way of defining a kind of things from a relation between
things is perfectly legitimate and altogether open-ended. Given any
relation *R*, we can define ‘an R’ to apply to
anything *x* that stands in *R* to something *y*.
For example, we can define a ‘schmapple’ to be an apple in
a barrel. All this is fine. But we can't *infer* from such a
definition that the same apple might be two different schmapples. From
the fact that someone is the father of two different children, we don't
judge that he is two different fathers. The fact that airlines choose
to count passengers as they do, rather than track persons, is their
business, not logic's.

However, when *R* is an equivalence relation, we are entitled
to such an inference. Consider the notorious case of "surmen" (Geach
1967). A pair of men are the "same surman" if they have the same
surname; and a surman is a man who bears this relation to someone. So
now it appears that that two different men can be the same surman,
since two different men can have the same surname. As Geach (1967)
insists (also Geach 1973), surmen are *defined* to be men, so
they are not merely classes of men. Hence we seem to have an instance
of RI, and obviously any similarity relation (e.g., *x* and
*y* have the same shape) will give rise to a similar case. Yet
such instances of RI are not very interesting. It is granted all around
that when ‘*F*’ is adjectival, different *G*s
may be the same *F*. Different men may have the same surname,
different objects, the same color, etc. Turning an adjectival
similarity relation into a substantival one having the form of an
identity statement yields an identity statement in name only.

A word about the point of view of those who subscribe to the weak
version of RI. The view (call it the ‘weak view’) is that
ordinary identity relations concerning (largely) the world of
contingency and change are equivalence relations answering to
restricted forms of LL. The exact nature of the restriction depends on
the equivalence relation itself, though there is an element of
generality. The kinds of properties preserved by the *same dog*
relation are intuitively the same *kinds* of properties as are
preserved by the *same cat* relation. From a logical point of
view the best that can be said is that any identity relation, like any
equivalence relation, preserves a certain minimal set of properties.
For suppose *E* is some equivalence relation. Let *S* be
the set containing all formulas of the form
*E*(*x*,*y*), and closed under the formation of
negations, conjunctions, and quantification. Then *E* preserves
any property expressed by a formula in *S*. Furthermore, on this
view, although absolutely distinct objects may be the same *F*,
absolutely identical objects cannot differ at all. Any instance of RI
implies that *x* and *y* are absolutely distinct.

## 4. The Paradoxes Reconsidered

Let us look back at the paradoxes of identity outlined in §2
from the perspective of the weak view regarding relative identity. That
view allows that absolutely distinct objects may be the same
*F*, but denies that absolutely identical objects can be
different *G*'s. This implies that if *x* and *y*
are relatively different objects, then *x* and *y* are
absolutely distinct, and hence only pairs of absolutely distinct
objects can satisfy RI. If *x* and *y* are absolutely
distinct, we shall say that *x* and *y* are distinct
‘logical objects’; and similarly, if *x* and
*y* are absolutely identical objects, then *x* and
*y* are identical logical objects. The term ‘logical
object’ does not stand for some new and special kind of thing.
Absolutely distinct apples, for example, are distinct logical
objects.

The following is the barest sketch of relativist solutions to the paradoxes of identity discussed in §2. No attempt is made to fully justify any proposed solution, though a modicum of justification emerges in the course of §6. It should be kept in mind that some of the strength of the relativist solutions derives from the weaknesses of the absolutist alternatives, some of which are discussed in §2.

### 4.1 The Paradox of Change

Young Oscar and old Oscar are the same dog but absolutely different
things, i.e. different logical objects. The material conditions
rendering young Oscar and old Oscar the same dog (and the same
Dalmatian) are precisely the same as the material conditions under
which young Oscar and old Oscar would qualify as temporal parts of the
same dog. The only difference is *logical*. The identity
relation between young Oscar and old Oscar can be formalized in an
extensional logic (Deutsch 1997), but a theory of temporal parts
requires a modal/temporal apparatus. Young Oscar is wholly present
during his youth and possesses the simple, non-relational, property of
not having a gray muzzle.

### 4.2 Chrysippus' Paradox

Oscar and Oscar-minus both survive Oscar's loss of a tail. At both
*t* and *t*′ Oscar and Oscar-minus are the same
dog, but at *t*, Oscar and Oscar-minus are distinct logical
objects. This implies (by ND) that Oscar and Oscar-minus are distinct
logical objects even at *t*′ Hence, we must allow that
distinct logical objects may occupy the same space at the same time.
This is not a problem, however. For although Oscar and Oscar-minus are
distinct logical objects at *t*′, they are physically
coincident.

### 4.3 The Paradox of 101 Dalmatians

The relativist denies that dogs are "maximal." It is not true that no proper part of a dog is dog. All the 101 (and more) proper parts of Oscar differing from him and from one another by a hair are dogs. In fact, many (though of course not all) identity preserving changes Oscar might undergo correspond directly to proper parts of (an unchanged) Oscar. But there is no problem about barking in unison, and no problem about acting independently. All 101 are the same dog, despite their differences, just as young Oscar and old Oscar are the same dog, . The relativist denies that the dogs are many rather than deny that the many are dogs (Lewis 1993).

### 4.4 The Paradox of Constitution

Constitution is identity, *absolute* identity. The relation
between the piece of clay *c* and the statue
*s*_{1} on day 1 is one of absolute identity. So we
have that *c* = *s*_{1} on day 1, and for the
same reason, *c* = *s*_{2} on day
2. Furthermore, since *s*_{1} and
*s*_{2} are different statues, it follows (on the weak
view) that *s*_{1}≠*s*_{2}. In
addition, the piece of clay *c* constituting
*s*_{1} on day 1 is (relatively) the same piece of clay
as the piece of clay constituting *s*_{2} on day
2. (The identity is relative because we have distinct objects —
the two statues — that are the same piece of clay.) It follows
that *no name of the piece of clay c can be a rigid designator in
the standard sense*. That is, no name of *c* denotes
absolutely the same thing on day 1 and on day 2. For on day 1, a name
of the piece of clay *c* would denote *s*_{1}
and on day 2, it would denote *s*_{2}, and
*s*_{1} and *s*_{2} are absolutely
distinct. Nevertheless, a name of the piece of clay may be
*relatively rigid*: it may denote at each time the
*same* *piece of clay*. Although no name of the piece of
clay *c* is absolutely rigid, that does not prevent the
introduction of a name of *c* that denotes *c* at any
time (or possible world). (Kraut 1980 discusses a related notion of
relative rigidity.)

There is, however, a certain ambiguity in the notion of a name of
the piece of clay, inasmuch as the piece of clay may be any number of
absolutely distinct objects. The notion of relative rigidity
presupposes that a name for the piece of clay refers, with respect to
some parameter *p*, to whatever object counts as the piece of
clay relative to that parameter. This may be sufficient in the case of
the piece of clay, but in other cases it is not. With respect to a
fixed parameter *p* there may be no unique object to serve as
the referent of the name. For example, if any number of dog parts
count, at a fixed time, as the same dog, then which of these objects
serves as the referent of ‘Oscar’? We shall leave this
question open for the time being but suggest that it may be worthwhile
to view names such as ‘Oscar’ as *instantial* terms
— terms introduced into discourse by means of existential
instantiation. The name ‘Oscar’ might be taken as denoting
a representative member of the equivalence class of distinct objects
qualifiying as the same dog as Oscar. It would follow, then, that most
ordinary names are instantial terms. (An alternative is that of Geach
1980, who draws a distinction between a *name of* and a *name
for an* object; see Noonan 1997 for discussion of Geach's
distinction.)

### 4.5 The Ship of Theseus Paradox

In this case, the relativist, as so far understood, may seem to enjoy
no advantage over the absolutist. The problem is not clearly one of
reconciling LL with ordinary judgments of identity, and the advantage
afforded by RI does not seem applicable. Griffin (1977), for example,
relying on RI, claims that the original and remodeled ship are the
same ship but not the same collection of planks, whereas the
reassembled ship is the same collection of planks as the original but
not the same ship. This simply doesn't resolve the problem. The
problem is that the reassembled and remodeled ships have, *prima
facie*, equal claim to be the original and so the bald claims that
the reassembled ship is not—and the remodeled ship is—the
original are unsupported. The problem is that of reconciling the
intuition that certain small changes (replacement of a single part or
small portion) preserve identity, with the problem illustrated by the
sandals example of §2.5. It turns out, nevertheless, that the
problem *is* one of dealing with the excesses of LL. To resolve
the problem, we need an additional level of relativity. To motivate
this development, consider the following abstract counterpart of the
sandals example:

On the left there is an object *P* composed of three parts,
*P*_{1}, *P*_{2}, and
*P*_{3}. On the right is an exactly similar but
non-identical object, *Q*, composed of exactly similar parts,
*Q*_{1}, *Q*_{2}, and
*Q*_{3}, in exactly the same arrangement. For the sake
of illustration, we adopt the rule that only replacement of (at most) a
*single* part by an exactly similar part preserves identity.
Suppose we now interchange the parts of *P* and *Q*. We
begin by replacing *P*_{1} by *Q*_{1} in
*P* and replacing *Q*_{1} by
*P*_{1} in *Q*, to obtain objects
*P*^{1} and *Q*^{1}. So
*P*^{1} is composed of parts *Q*_{1},
*P*_{2}, and *P*_{3}, and Q^{1}
is composed of parts *P*_{1}, *Q*_{2},
and *Q*_{3}. We then replace *P*_{2} in
*P*^{1} by *Q*_{2}, to obtain
*P*^{2}, and so on. Given our sample criterion of
identity, and assuming the transitivity of identity, *P* and
*P*^{3} are counted the same, as are *Q* and
*Q*^{3}. But this appears to be entirely the wrong
result. Intuitively, *P* and *Q*^{3} are the
same, as are *Q* and *P*^{3}. For *P* and
*Q*^{3} are composed of exactly the same parts put
together in exactly the same way, and similarly for *Q* and
*P*^{3}. Futhermore, *Q*_{3}
(*P*_{3}) can be viewed as simply the result of taking
*P* (*Q*) apart and putting *it* back together in
a slightly different location. And this last difference can be
eliminated by switching the locations of *P*^{3} and
*Q*^{3} as a last step in the process.

Suppose, however, that we replace our criterion of identity by the
following more complicated rule: *x* and *y* are the same
*relative to z*, if both *x* and *y* differ from
*z* at most by a single part. (This relation is transitive, and
is in fact an equivalence relation.) For example, *relative to
P*, *P*, *P*^{1}, *Q*^{2}, and
*Q*^{3} are the same, but *Q*,
*Q*^{1}, *P*^{2} and
*P*^{3}, are not. Of course, replacement by a single
part is an artificial criterion of identity. In actual cases, it will
be a matter of the degree or kind of deviation *from the
original* (represented by the third parameter, *z*). The
basic idea is that identity through change is not a matter of identity
through successive, accumulated changes — that notion conflicts with
both intuition (e.g., the sandals example) and the Kripkean argument:
Through successive changes objects can evolve into *other*
objects. The three-place relation of idenitity does not satisfy LL and
is consistent with the outlook of the relativist. Gupta (1980)
develops a somewhat similar idea in detail. Williamson (1990) suggests
a rather different approach, but one that, like the above, treats
identity through change as an equivalence relation that does not
satisfy LL.

### 4.6 Church's Paradox

Church's argument implies that if Pierre's doxastic position is as
described (in §2.6), then London and Londres are distinct objects.
Assuming the standard account of identity, the result is that either
Pierre's doxastic position *cannot* be as described or else
London and Londres are different *cities* (or else we must
punt). Since London and Londres are not different cities, the standard
account entails that Pierre's doxastic position cannot be as described
(or else we must punt). This was Church's own position as regards
certain puzzles about synonymy, such as Mate's puzzle (Mates 1952).
Church held that one who believes that lawyers are lawyers, must indeed
believe that lawyers are attorneys, despite any refusal to assent to
(or desire to dissent from) ‘Lawyers are attorneys’
(Church 1954). Kripke later argued (Kripke 1979) that assent and
failure to assent must be taken at face value (at least in the case of
Pierre) and Pierre's doxastic position is as described. Kripke chose to
punt — concluding that the problem is a problem for any "logic" of
belief. The relativist concludes instead that (a) Pierre's doxastic
position is as described, (b) if so, London and Londres are distinct
objects, and (c) London and Londres are nonetheless the same city.
Whether this resolution of Church's paradox can be exploited to yield
solutions to Frege's puzzle (Salmon 1986) or Kripke's puzzle (1979)
remains to be seen. Crimmins (1998) has recently suggested that the
analysis of propositional attitudes requires a notion of "semantic
pretense." In reporting Pierre's doxastic position we engage in a
pretense to the effect that London and Londres are different cities
associated with different Fregean senses. Crimmins' goal is to
reconcile (a), (c) and the following, (d): that the pure semantics of
proper names (’London’, ‘Londres’) is Millian
or directly referential (Kripke 1979). The relativist proposes just
such a reconciliation but suggests that the pretense can be dropped.

## 5. Absolute Identity

The philosopher P.T. Geach first broached the subject of relative identity and introduced the phrase ‘relative identity’. Over the years, Geach has suggested specific instances of RI (a variant of the case of Oscar and his tail is due to Geach (Geach 1980)) and in this way he has contributed to the development of the weak view concerning relative identity, i.e. the view that while ordinary identity relations are often relative, some are not. But Geach maintains that absolute identity does not exist. What is his argument?

That is hard to say. Geach sets up two strawman candidates for
absolute identity, one at the beginning of his discussion and one at
the end, and he easily disposes of both. In between he develops an
interesting and influential argument to the effect that identity,
*even as formalized in the system* FOL^{=}, is relative
identity. However, Geach takes himself to have shown, by this argument,
that absolute identity does not exist. At the end of his initial
presentation of the argument in his 1967 paper, Geach remarks:

We thought we had a criterion for a predicable's expressing strict identity [i.e., as Geach says, "strict, absolute, unqualified identity"] but the thing has come apart in our hands; and no alternative rigorous criterion that could replace this one has thus far been suggested. (Geach 1972, p. 241)

It turns out, as we'll see, that all that comes apart is the false
notion that in FOL^{=} the identity symbol *defines* the
relation *I*(*A*,*x*,*y*). Let us examine
Geach's line of reasoning in detail, focusing on the presentation in
his 1967 article, the *locus classicus* of the notion of
relative identity.

Geach begins by urging that a plain identity statement
‘*x* and *y* are the same’ is in need of a
completing predicate: ‘*x* and *y* are the same
*F*’. Frege had argued that statements of number such as
‘this is one’ require a completing predicate: ‘this
is one *F*’, and so it is, Geach claims, with identity
statements. This is a natural view for one who subscribes to RI. The
latter cannot even be stated without the completing predicates.
Nevertheless, both the claim itself and the analogy with Frege have
been questioned. Some argue that the analogy with Frege is incorrect,
others that while the analogy is correct, both Frege and Geach are
wrong (Perry 1978 and Bennett and Alston 1984). These matters will be
discussed in greater detail in an updated version of this article. They
do not bear directly on the question of the coherence and truth of RI
or the question of absolute identity. One who adopts the weak view
would not want to follow Geach on this score. And one could maintain
the "completing thesis" without being committed to RI. Furthermore, the
completing thesis occupies a puzzling role in Geach's dialectic.
Immediately following his statement of the thesis, Geach formalizes
FOL^{=} on the basis of the single formula:

W: φ(a) ↔ ∃x(φ(x) ∧x = a)

(The ‘W’ is for Hao Wang, who first suggested it. The
reader is invited to prove Ref and LL from W.) But we hear no complaint
about the syntax of W despite its involving a seemingly unrelativized
identity symbol. It turns out, however, that Geach apparently thinks of
the completing predicate as being given by the whole descriptive
apparatus of *L* or a fragment thereof.

Geach now observes

… if we consider a moment, we see that anI-predicable in given theoryTneed notexpress strict, absolute, unqualified identity; it need mean no more than that two objects are indiscernible by the predicables that form the descriptive resources of the theory — the ideology of the theory … . (p. 240)

Here an ‘I-predicable’ is a binary relation symbol
‘=’ satisfying (W). Geach's focus at this point is on the
need to relativize an *I*-predicable to a theory *T*.
Geach then immediately saddles the friend of absolute identity with
the view that for "real identity" we need not bring in the ideology of
a definite theory. This is Geach's first strawman. When logicians, in
discussing FOL^{=}, speak of "real identity" — and they
often do (see Enderton 2000 or Silver 1994, for example) — they
do not mean a relation of *universal identity*, since the
universal set does not exist. Nor do they intend, in formulating LL,
to use ‘true of’ in a completely unrestrained way which
gives rise to semantic paradox. It is no argument against those who
wish to distinguish mere indiscernibility from real identity to say
that they "will soon fall into contradictions," e.g., Grelling's or
Russell's. The relation
*I*(*A*,*x*,*y*) is sufficiently
relativized. (It is relativized to a *set A*.)

We come next to the main point:

Objects that are indiscernible when we are confined to the ideology of T may perfectly well be discernible in ideology of a theory T^{1}of which T is a fragment. (p. 240)

The warrant for this claim can only be the language relativity of identity when treated as a non-logical notion (see §1). That this is what Geach has in mind is clear from some approving remarks he makes in his 1973 article about Quine's (1970) proposal to treat identity as a non-logical notion. But how does it follow that absolute identity does not exist? Geach seems to think that the defender of absolute identity will look to Ref and LL (or W) — and not beyond — for a full account of "strict, absolute, unqualified" identity. That is not so. The fact that these formulas in themselves define only indiscernibility relations is a logical commonplace. So this is Geach's second strawman.

Is Geach's argument at least an argument that identity is relative?
Does language relativity support the conclusion that RI is true even of
identity as formalized in FOL^{=}? The general idea appears to
be that language relativity suggests that we take identity *to
be* indiscernibility, and conclude that objects identical relative
to one ideology *F* may be different relative to another
ideology *G*, and that this confirms RI. Notice first of all
that this argument relies on the identity of indiscernibles: that
indiscernibility implies identity. This principle is not valid in
FOL^{=} even when the latter is treated as a proper theory.
Language relativity does not imply that the distinctness of distinct
objects cannot go unnoticed.

Secondly, the interesting cases of RI do not involve a shift from an
impoverished point of view to an improved one — whether this is
seen in epistemic terms (which Geach disputes — Geach, (1973))
or in purely logical terms. We do not affirm that old Oscar and young
Oscar, for example, are the same dog on the grounds that there is an
ideology with respect to which old Oscar and young Oscar are
indistinguishable. Such an ideology would be incapable of describing
any change in Oscar. It is true that the *same dog* relation
determines a set of predicates that do not discriminate between the
members of certain pairs of dogs — the dogs in the photographs
mentioned in earlier, for example. And it is true that these
predicates determine a sublanguage in which the *same dog*
relation is a congruence, i.e. no predicate of the sublanguage
distinguishes *x* from *y*, if *x* and *y*
are the same dog. But the very *sense* of such statements as
that old Oscar and young Oscar are the same dog requires a language in
which a change in Oscar is expressible. We are talking, after all,
about *old* Oscar and *young* Oscar. If we take
seriously the idea that change involves the application of
incompatible predicates, then the sublanguage cannot express the
contrast between old Oscar and young Oscar.

Third, the phenomenon of language relativity (in the technical sense
discussed in §1) has led many philosophers, including Geach, to
the view that ideology creates ontology. There is no antecedently given
domain of objects, already individuated, and waiting to be described.
Instead, theories carve up the world in various ways, rendering some
things noticeably distinct and others indiscernible, depending on a
theories' descriptive resources. The very notion of *object* is
theory-bound (Kraut 1980). This sort of anti-realism may seem to go
hand in hand with relative identity. Model theory, however, is realist
to its core and language relativity is a model-theoretic phenomenon. It
is a matter of definability (in a structure). Referring back to
§1, in order to make sense of language relativity we have to start
with a pair of *distinct* objects, *a* and *b*,
(distinct from the standpoint of the metalanguage), and hence a pair of
objects we assume are already individuated. These objects, however, are
indistinguishable in *M*, since no formula of *L*′
defines a subset of *M* containing the one object and not the
other. When we move to *M*′, we find that there is a
formula of the enriched language that defines such a subset in
*M*′. Thus, language relativity is not really any sort
relativity of *identity* at all. We must assume that the objects
*a* and *b* are distinct in order to *describe*
the phenomenon. If we are living in *M*, and suspect that
Martians living in *M*′ can distinguish *a* from
*b*, our suspicion is not merely to the effect that Martians
carve things up differently than we do. Our own model theory tells us
that there is more to it than that. Our suspicion must be to the effect
that *a* and *b* *are* absolutely distinct. If we
are blind to the difference between *a* and *b*, but the
Martians are not, then there must be a difference; and even if we are
living in *M*, we know there's a difference, or at least we can
suspect there is, since model theory tells us that such suspicion is
well founded.

Let us go back to Geach's remark that we "*need not*"
interpret identity absolutely. While this is true, we need not
interpret it as indiscernibility either. There are always the quotient
structures (Quine 1963) . Instead of taking our "reality" to be
*M*, and our "identity" to be indiscernibility in *M*, we
can move to the quotient structure, *QM*, whose elements are the
equivalence classes, [*x*], for *x* in *M*. If
*x* and *y* are indiscernible in *M*, then in
*QM*, [*x*] and [*y*] are absolutely identical. We
can do this even if we wish to treat FOL^{=} as a proper
theory. For example, suppose *L*′ is a language in which
people having the same income are indiscernible. The domain of
*M* now consists of people. *QM*, however, consists of
income groups, equivalence classes of people having the same income,
and identity in *QM* is absolute. Geach objects to such
reinterpretation in terms of the quotient structures on the grounds
that it increases the ontological commitments not only of
*L*′ but of any language of which *L*′ is a
sublanguage.

Let's focus on *L*′ first. From a purely model-theoretic
point of view the question is moot. We cannot deny that *QM* is
a structure for *L*′. Thus, *L*′ is
committed to people *vis à vis* one structure and to
income groups *vis à vis* the corresponding quotient
structure. But let's pretend that the structures are "representations
of reality," and so the question now becomes: Which representation is
preferable? Is there then any reason to prefer the ontology of
*M* to that of *QM*? *M* contains people but no
sets of people, whereas *QM* contains sets of people but no
people. By Quine's criterion of ontological commitment — that to
be is to be the value of a variable — commitment to a set of
objects does not carry a commitment to its elements. That is one of
the odd consequences of Quine's criterion. Unless there is some
ontological reason to prefer people to sets of people (perhaps because
sets are never to be preferred), the ontologies of *M* and
*QM* seem pretty much on a par. Both commit *L*′
to one kind of thing.

Geach makes the additional claim that the ontological commitments of a
sublanguage *L*′ of a language *L* are inherited
by *L* (Geach 1973). Suppose then that *L* is a
language containing expressions for several equivalence relations
defined on people: say, *same income*, *same surname*,
and *same job*. Geach argues that *L* need only be
committed to the existence of people. Things such as income groups,
job groups (equivalence classes of people with the same job), and
surmen can all be counted using the equivalencies, without bringing
surmen, job groups, and income groups into the picture. Consider any
sublanguage for which any one of these equivalence relations is a
congruence, i.e. for which LL′ holds. Pick the language,
*L*_{1}, for example, in which people having the same
job are indiscernible. More precisely, we assume that
*T*_{1} is the pure theory with identity whose ideology
is confined to the language *L*_{1}. Let
*M*_{1} be a model of *T*_{1}. We may
imagine the domain of *M*_{1} to consist of people, and
we can interpret indiscernibility in *M*_{1} to be the
relation *x and y have the same job*. Geach would argue that if
*L*_{1} is committed to the elements of
*QM*_{1} — the job groups — then so is
*L*. But that is not true. If *T* is a theory of the
three distinct equivalence relations formulated in *L*, the
most *T* (or *L*) would be committed to are the
partitions determined by the equivalence relations; and in any case,
it would be perfectly consistent to insist that, whatever the
ontological commitments of *L*_{1}, reality, as
described by *L*, consists of people.

The foregoing considerations are rather abstract. To see more
clearly what is at stake, let us focus on a specific example. Geach
(1967) mentions that rational numbers are defined set-theoretically to
be equivalence classes of integers determined by a certain equivalence
relation defined on "fractions," i.e. ordered pairs of integers (1/2 is
<1,2>, 2/4 is <2,4>, etc.). He suggests that we can instead
construe our theory of rational numbers to be about the fractions
themselves, taking the *I*-predicable of our theory to be the
following equivalence relation, *E*:

R:E(<x,y>, <u,v>) iffxv = yu.

This approach, Geach says, would have "the advantage of lightening a
theory's set-theoretical burdens. (In our present example, we need not
bring in *infinite sets* of ordered pairs of integers into the
theory of rationals.)."

The first thing to notice about this example is that *E cannot*
be the I-predicable of such a theory, since *E* is
*defined* in terms of identity (look at the right side of
R). It is ‘=’ that must serve as the
*I*-predicable, and it renders distinct ordered pairs of
integers discernible. The moral is that not all equivalence relations
can be drafted to do the job of identity, even given a limited
ideology. There is, indeed, a plausible argument that *any*
equivalence relation presupposes identity — not necessarily in
the direct way illustrated by (R), but indirectly, nonetheless (see
§6). Moreover, from the standpoint of general mathematics, once
we have (R), we have the (infinite) equivalence classes it determines
and the partition it induces. These are inescapable. Even from a more
limited viewpoint, it seems that once we have enough set theory to
give us ordered pairs of integers and the ability to define (R), we
get the partition it induces as well.

Geach perceives an ontological advantage in relative identity; but
his argument is unconvincing. Shifting to the quotient structures, as
Quine suggested, does not induce a "baroque, Meinongian ontology"
(Geach 1967). In particular, the "home language" (*L*) does not
inherit the commitment of the fragment (*L*_{1}), and
the ontology of an arbitrary model of the pure theory of identity based
on the latter language is at least no more various than that of the
corresponding quotient model. There are, however, a number of ways in
which relative identity does succeed in avoiding commitment to certain
entities required by its absolute rival. These are discussed in the
replies to objections 4 and 5 in the next section.

## 6. Objections and Replies

The following constitute a "start up" set of objections and replies concerning relative identity and/or aspects of the foregoing account of relative identity and its rival. Time and space constraints prevent a more extended initial discussion. In addition, there is no presumption that the objections discussed below are the most important or that the initial replies to them are without fault. It is hoped that the present discussion will evolve into a more full blown one, involving contributions by the author and readers alike. Should the discussion become lengthy, old or unchallenged objections and/or replies can be placed in the archives.

**Objection 1**: "Relativist theories of identity, all
of which are inconsistent with Leibniz's principle [LL], currently
enjoy little support. The doubts about them are (a) whether they really
are theories of numerical identity, (b) whether they can be made
internally consistent, and (c) whether they are sufficiently
motivated." (Burke 1994.)

**Reply**: In reverse order: (c) The issues discussed
in §2 and §4 surely provide sufficient motivation. (b) No
proof of inconsistency has ever been forthcoming from opponents of
relative identity, and in fact the weak view is consistent inasmuch as
it has a model in the theory of similarity relations. The arguments
outlined in the second paragraph of §3 are frequently cited as
showing that relative identity is incoherent; but they show only that
RI is incompatible with (unrestricted) LL. (a) See the replies to
objections 2 and 3 below.

**Objection 2**: If an identity relation obeys only a
restricted form of LL — if it preserves only *some*
properties and not *all* — then how do we *tell*
which properties serve to individuate a pair of distinct objects?

**Reply**: Similarity relations satisfy only restricted
forms of LL. How then do we *tell* which properties are
preserved by the *same shape* relation and which are not? It is
no objection to the thesis that identity relations in general preserve
some properties and not others to demand to know which are which. At
best the objection points to a problem we must face anyway (for the
case of similarity). In general, a property is preserved by an
equivalence relation if it "spreads" in an equivalence class determined
by the relation: If one member of the class has the property, then
every member does. Every property spreads in a singleton, as absolute
identity demands.

**Objection 3**: If identity statements are mere
equivalencies, what distinguishes identity from mere similarity?

**Reply**: The distinction between identity and
similarity *statements* (or sentences) is usually drawn in
terms of the distinction between substantival and adjectival common
nouns. If *F* is a common noun standing for a kind of
*things* e.g., ‘horse’, then ‘*x* and
*y* are the same *F*’ is a statement of identity,
whereas if *F* is an a common noun standing for a kind of
*properties* of things, then ‘*x* and *y*
are the same *F*’ is a statement of similarity. (It's
interesting to note that when the noun is proper, i.e. a proper name,
the result is a statement of similarity, not identity — as in
‘He's not the same Bill we knew before’.) This distinction
rests ultimately on the metaphysical distinction between substance and
attribute, object and property. While the distinction no doubt
presupposes the concept of individuation (the bundle theory, for
example, presupposes that we have the means to individuate
properties), there is no obvious reason to suppose that it entails the
denial of RI, i.e. the claim that no instance of RI is true. For a
beginner's review — from an historical perspective — of
the issues concerning substance and attribute, see O'Connor, (1967);
and for more recent and advanced discussion and bibliography, see the
entry on
properties.

**Objection 4**: Consider the following alleged
instance of RI:

*A*is the same word type as*B*, but*A*and*B*are different word tokens.

"If ‘*A*’ and ‘*B*’ refer to
the same objects throughout (1), the first conjunct of (1) is not an
identity statement, and the counterexample (to the thesis that no
instance of RI is true) fails. If both conjuncts are identity
statements in the required sense, ‘*A*’ and
‘*B*’ must refer to word types in the first conjunct
and word tokens in the second, and the counterexample fails" (Perry
1970).

**Reply**: First, if "in the required sense" means
"satisfies LL," then the objection buys correctness only at the price
of begging the question. Advocates of relative identity will maintain
that the relation *A is the same word type as* *B* is an
identity relation, defined on tokens, that does not satisfy LL.

Secondly, even if one insists that in this case intuition dictates
that if *A* and *B* refer to tokens in both conjuncts of
(1), then ‘*A* is the same word type as *B*’
expresses only the similarity relation: *A and B are tokens of the
same type*, there are other cases where, intuitively, both
conjuncts of RI involve identity relations and yet the relevant terms
all refer to the same kind of things; for example,

*A*and*B*are the same dog but*A*and*B*are different physical objects,

as said of young Oscar and old Oscar. Here there is no temptation to
suppose that the relation *A and B are the same dog* is
*not* an identity relation. One may invoke a theory — a theory
of temporal parts, for example — that construes the relation as a
certain kind of similarity, but that is theory, not pretheoretical
intuition. It is no objection to the relativist's *theory*,
which holds in part that ‘*A* and *B* are the same
dog’ expresses a relation of primitive identity, that there is an
alternative theory according to which it expresses a similarity
relation obtaining between two temporal parts of the same object.
Furthermore, in the case of (2), *A* and *B* refer, again
intuitively, to the same things in both conjuncts.

Third, there are cases in which the relative identity view does possess an ontological advantage. Consider

*A*and*B*are the same piece of clay but*A*and*B*are different statues.

Suppose *A* and *B* are understood to refer to one sort
of thing — pieces of clay — in the first conjunct and
another — statues — in the second conjunct. Assume that
the piece of clay *c* denoted by *A* in the first
conjunct constitutes, at time *t*, the statue *s.* Then
assuming that statues are physical objects, there are two distinct
physical objects belonging to different kinds occupying the same space
at *t*. Some, notably Wiggins (1980), hold that this is
entirely possible: Distinct physical objects may occupy the same space
at the same time, provided they belong to different kinds. The
temporal parts doctrine supports and encourages this view. A statue
may be a temporal part of a temporally extended piece of clay. But one
statue, it seems, cannot be a temporal part of another. Even so,
however, the duality of constituter and thing constituted is
unparsimonious (cf. Lewis 1993), and the relativist is not committed
to it.

Again, consider

*A*and*B*are the same book but*A*and*B*are different copies (of the book).

One can say that in the first conjunct, *A* and *B*
refer to books (absolutely the same book), whereas in the second
conjunct, *A* and *B* refer to (absolutely distinct)
copies. But the alleged duality of books and copies of books is
unparsimonious and the relativist is not committed to it. There is no
reason to concede to the philosopher that we do not actually purchase
or read *books*; instead we purchase and read only
*copies* of books. Any copy of a book is just as much the "book
itself" as is any other copy. Any copy of a book is *the same
book* as any other copy. Nelson Goodman once remarked that "Any
accurate copy of a poem is as much the original work as any other"
(Goodman 1968). Goodman was not suggesting that the distinction
between poem and copy collapses. If it does collapse, however, we have
an explanation of why any accurate copy is as much the original work as
any other: any such copy is the same work as any other.

**Objection 5**: Geach remarks that "As for our
recognizing relative identity predicables: any equivalence
relation…can be used to specify a criterion of relative identity."
But §3 above contains a counterexample. Some equivalence relations
are defined in terms of the I-predicable of a theory and hence cannot
serve as such. (Any pair of I-predicables for a fixed theory are
equivalent.) In fact it seems that any equivalence relation presupposes
identity (cf. McGinn 2000). For example, the relation *x and*
*y are the same color* presupposes identity of colors, since it
means that there are colors *C* and *C*′ such that
*x* has *C* and *y* has *C*′, and
*C* = *C*′. Identity, therefore, is logically prior
to equivalence.

**Reply:** This is a good objection. It does seem to
show, as the objector says, that identity is logically prior to
ordinary similarity relations. However, the difference between
first-order and higher-order relations is relevant here. Traditionally,
similarity relations such as *x and y are the same color* have
been represented, in the way indicated in the objection, as
higher-order relations involving identities between higher order
objects (properties). Yet this treatment may not be inevitable. In
Deutsch (1997), an attempt is made to treat similarity relations of the
form ‘*x* and *y* are the same *F*’
(where *F* is adjectival) as primitive, first-order, purely
logical relations (see also Williamson 1988). If successful, a
first-order treatment of similarity would show that the impression that
identity is prior to equivalence is merely a misimpression — due to
the assumption that the usual higher-order account of similarity
relations is the only option.

**Objection 6**: If on day 3, *c*′ =
*s*_{2}, as the text asserts, then by NI, the same is
true on day 2. But the text also asserts that on day 2, *c* =
*s*_{2}; yet *c* ≠ *c*′. This is
incoherent.

**Reply:** The term *s*_{2} is not an
absolutely rigid designator and so NI does not apply.

**Objection 7**: The notion of relative identity is
incoherent: "If a cat and one of its proper parts are one and the same
cat, what is the mass of that one cat?" (Burke 1994)

**Reply**: Young Oscar and Old Oscar are the same dog,
but it makes no sense to ask: "What is the mass of that one dog." Given
the possibility of change, identical objects may differ in mass. On the
relative identity account, that means that distinct logical objects
that are the same *F* may differ in mass — and may differ with
respect to a host of other properties as well. Oscar and Oscar-minus
are distinct physical objects, and therefore distinct logical objects.
Distinct physical objects may differ in mass.

**Objection 8**: We can solve the paradox of 101
Dalmatians by appeal to a notion of "almost identity" (Lewis 1993). We
can admit, in light of the "problem of the many" (Unger 1980), that
the 101 dog parts are dogs, but we can also affirm that the 101 dogs
are not many; for they are "almost one." Almost-identity is not a
relation of indiscernibility, since it is not transitive, and so it
differs from relative identity. It is a matter of negligible
difference. A series of negligible differences can add up to one that
is not negligible.

**Reply**: The difference between Oscar and Oscar-minus
is not negligible and the two are not almost-identical. Lewis concedes
this point but proposes to combine almost-identity with supervaluations
to give a mixed solution to the paradox. The supervaluation solution
starts from the assumption that one and only one of the dog parts is a
dog (and a Dalmatian, and Oscar), but it doesn't matter which. It
doesn't matter which because we haven't decided as much, and we aren't
going to. Since it is true that any such decision renders one and only
one dog part a dog, it is plain-true, i.e. supertrue, that there is one
and only one dog in the picture. But it is not clear that this approach
enjoys any advantage over that of relative identity; in fact, it seems
to produce instances of RI. Compare: Fred's bicycle has a basket
attached to it. Ordinarily, our discourse slides over the difference
between Fred's bicycle with its basket attached and Fred's bicycle
minus the basket. (In this respect, the case of Fred's bicycle differs
somewhat from that of Oscar and Oscar-minus. We tend not to ignore
*that* difference.) In particular, we don't say that Fred has
two bicycles even if we allow that Fred's bicycle-minus is a bicycle.
Both relative identity and supervaluations validate this intuition.
However, both relative identity and supervaluations also affirm that
Fred's bicycle and Fred's bicycle-minus are absolutely distinct
objects. That is, the statement that Fred's bicycle and Fred's
bicycle-minus are distinct is supertrue. So the supervaluation
technique affirms both that Fred's bicycle and Fred's bicycle-minus are
distinct objects *and* that there is one and only one (relevant)
bicycle. That is RI, or close enough. The supervaluation approach is
not so much an alternative to relative identity as a form of it.

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identity: of indiscernibles | logic: ancient | logic: classical | personal identity | properties | vagueness