# Epistemic Logic

*First published Wed Jan 4, 2006*

Epistemic logic is the logic of knowledge and belief. It provides insight into the properties of individual knowers, has provided a means to model complicated scenarios involving groups of knowers and has improved our understanding of the dynamics of inquiry.

## 1. The Logic of Individual Knowers

Epistemic logic gets its start with the recognition that expressions like ‘knows that’ or ‘believes that’ have systematic properties that are amenable to formal study. In addition to its relevance for traditional philosophical problems, epistemic logic has many applications in computer science and economics. Examples range from robotics, network security and cryptography applications to the study of social and coalitional interactions of various kinds.

Modern treatments of the logic of knowledge and belief grow out of the
work of a number of philosophers and logicians writing from 1948
through the 1950s. Rudolf Carnap, Jerzy Los, Arthur Prior, Nicholas
Rescher, G.H. von Wright and others recognized that our discourse
concerning knowledge and belief exhibits systematic features that
admit of an axiomatic-deductive treatment. Among the many important
papers that appeared in the 1950s, von Wright's seminal work (1951) is
widely recognized as having initiated the formal study of epistemic
logic as we know it today. Von Wright's insights were extended by
Jaakko Hintikka in his book *Knowledge and Belief: An Introduction
to the Logic of the Two Notions* (1962). In the 1980s and 1990s,
epistemic logicians focused on the logical properties of systems
containing groups of knowers and later still on the epistemic features
of so-called "multi-modal" contexts.

While this article deals with modern developments, epistemic logic
has a venerable history. In *De Sophisiticis Elenchis* as well
as in the *Prior* and *Posterior Analytics* Aristotle
mentions some aspects of the logic of knowledge and belief. In the
medieval period, Buridan, Duns Scotus and Ockham extended Aristotle's
insights in a series of detailed reflections whose themes and problems
would be familiar to contemporary epistemic logicians (Boh 1993,
Knuutila 1993).

Contemporary epistemic logic may appear quite technical and removed from
traditional epistemological reflections. However, it assumes as its starting
point some features of the logical behavior of epistemic concepts that are
completely obvious. For instance, claiming to know *p* and *q*
implies that you know *q*. Furthermore, most systems of epistemic logic
begin with an assumption similar to G.E. Moore's intuitively obvious
observation that one cannot coherently assert "*p* but I do not believe
(know) *p*". Additional assumptions that serve as the basis for most
epistemic logics include the recognition that knowledge implies veracity. If
I know *p* then *p* must be the case. Thus, commonsense
observations concerning the behavior of the term "knows that", have served
as the starting point for later technical developments.

For the most part, epistemic logic focuses on propositional
knowledge. Here, an agent or a group of agents bears the propositional
attitude *knowing* towards some proposition. So, when one says:
"Zoë knows that there is a chicken in the yard", one asserts that
Zoë is the agent who bears the propositional attitude
*knowing* towards the proposition expressed by "there is a
chicken in the yard". Beyond straightforward propositional knowledge
of this kind, epistemic logic also suggests ways to systematize the logic of questions and answers (Zoë knows why Murphy barked) and provides insight into the relationships between multiple modes of identification (Zoë knows that this man is the chief) and also perhaps even into questions of procedural
"know-how". Epistemic logicians have found ways to formally treat
a wide variety of knowledge claims in propositional terms.

Syntactically, the language of propositional epistemic logic is simply a
matter of augmenting the language of propositional logic with a unary
epistemic operator *K*_{c} such that

K_{c}Areads "Agent cknowsA

and similarly for belief

B_{c}Areads "Agent cbelievesA

for some arbitrary proposition *A*.

Hintikka provided a semantic interpretation of epistemic and doxastic operators which we can present in terms of standard possible world semantics along the following lines (Hintikka 1962):

K_{c}A:in all possible worlds compatible with whatcknows, it is the case that AB_{c}A:in all possible worlds compatible with whatcbelieves, it is the case that A

The basic assumption is that any ascription of propositional attitudes like knowledge and belief, involves dividing the set of possible worlds in two: Those worlds compatible with the attitude in question and those that are incompatible with it.

The set of worlds accessible to an agent depends on his or her
informational resources at that instant. It is possible to capture
this dependency by introducing a relation of accessibility,
*R*, on the set of possible worlds. To express the idea that
for agent *c*, the world *w*′ is compatible with his
information state, or accessible from the possible world *w*
which *c* is currently in, it is required that *R* holds
between *w* and *w*′. This relation is written
*Rww*′ and reads “world *w*′ is
accessible from *w*”. The world *w*′ is said
to be an *epistemic* or *doxastic alternative* to world
*w* for agent *c*, depending on whether knowledge or belief is
the considered attitude. Given the above semantical interpretation,
if a proposition *A* is true in all worlds which agent *c*
considers possible then *c* knows *A*.

A possible world semantics for a propositional epistemic logic with a
single agent *c* then consists of a *frame*
F
which in turn is a pair
<*W*,*R*_{c}> such that
*W* is a non-empty set of possible worlds and
*R*_{c} is a
binary accessibility relation (relative to agent *c*) over
*W*. A *model*
M
for an epistemic system consists of a frame and a denotation function
φ assigning sets of worlds to atomic propositional
formulas. Propositions are taken to be sets of possible worlds; namely
the set of possible worlds in which they are true. Let *atom*
be the set of atomic propositional formulae, then
φ : *atom*
*P*(*W*),
where *P* denotes the powerset operation. The model
M =
<*W*,*R*_{c},φ>
is called a Kripke-model and the resulting semantics Kripke-semantics
(Kripke 1963): An atomic propositional formula, **a**,
is said to be true in a world *w* in
M (written
M,*w*
⊨
**a**) iff *w* is in the set of
possible worlds assigned to **a**, i.e.,
M,*w*
⊨ **a**
iff *w* ∈ φ(**a**) for all **a**
∈ *atom* . The formula
*K*_{c}*A* is true in an world *w*
(i.e., M,*w*
⊨
*K*_{c}*A*) iff
∀*w*′∈*W*, if
*R _{c}ww*′, then
M,

*w*′ ⊨

*A*. The semantics for the Boolean connectives follow the usual recursive recipe. A modal formula is said to be

*valid*in a frame iff the formula is true for all possible assignments in all worlds in the frame.

Similar semantics may be formulated for the belief operator. Since a belief is not necessarily true but rather probably true, possibly true, or likely to be true, we must modify our approach to the semantics of belief appropriately. For instance, belief may be modeled by assigning a sufficiently high degree of probability to the proposition in question and determining the doxastic alternatives accordingly. The truth-conditions for the doxastic operator are defined in a way similar to that of the knowledge operator and the model may also be expanded to accommodate the two operators simultaneously.

An important feature of possible world semantics is that many common
epistemic axioms correspond to algebraic properties of the
frame in the following sense: A modal axiom is valid in a frame if and
only if the accessibility relation satisfies some algebraic
condition. For example, the axiom expressing the veridicality property
that if a proposition is known by *c*, then *A* is true,

(1)K_{c}A→A,

is valid in all frames in which the accessibility relation is
*reflexive* in the sense that
∀*w*∈*W* : *Rww*. Every
possible world is accessible from itself. Similarly if the
accessibility relation satisfies the condition that ∀
*w*, *w*′, *w*″
∈ *W* : *Rww*′
∧
*Rw*′*w*″ →
*Rww*″ then the axiom reflecting the idea that the agent
knows that he knows *A* if he does,

(2)K_{c}A→K_{c}K_{c}A,

is valid in all *transitive* frames. Other axioms of epistemic
import require yet other relational properties to be met in order to
be valid in all frames.

K K_{c}(A→A′) → (K_{c}A→K_{c}A′)D K_{c}A→ ¬K_{c}¬AT K_{c}A→A4 K_{c}A→K_{c}K_{c}A5 ¬ K_{c}A→K_{c}¬K_{c}A.2 ¬ K_{c}¬K_{c}A→K_{c}¬K_{c}¬A.3 K_{c}(K_{c}A→K_{c}A′) ∨K_{c}(K_{c}A′ →K_{c}A).4 A→ (¬K_{c}¬K_{c}A→K_{c}A)

Table 1: Common Epistemic Axioms

These axioms in proper combinations make up epistemic modal systems of varying strength depending on the modal formulas valid in the respective systems given the algebraic properties assumed for the accessibility relation.

Although the axiom
K by itself
constitutes the system **K**, the weakest system of
epistemic interest is usually considered to be system
**T**. [Note: The reader should
take care to distinguish the epistemic operator *K*,
the modal axiom
K and the system of
axioms **K** in what follows. Similarly, we distinguish
the axiom
T
from the system **T**.]
The system **T** includes the axioms
T and
K
as valid axioms. Additional modal strength may be obtained
by extending **T** with other axioms drawn from the above
pool altering the frame semantics to validate the additional
axioms. By way of example, while *K*_{c}*A*
→ *A* is valid in system **T**,
*K*_{c}*A* → *A*,
*K*_{c}*A* →
*K*_{c}*K*_{c}*A* and
¬*K*_{c}*A* →
*K*_{c}¬*K*_{c}*A* are
all valid in **S5** but not in **T**. System
**T** has a reflexive accessibility relation,
**S5** has an equivalence relation of accessibility. The
arrows in Table 2 symbolize that the system to which the arrow is
pointing is included in the system from which the arrow originates and
hence reflect relative strength. Then **S5** is the
strongest and **S4** the weakest of the ones listed.

Epistemic SystemsKT4 = S4KT4 + .2 = S4.2↑ KT4 + .3 = S4.3↑ KT4 + .4 = S4.4↑ KT5 = S5↑

Table 2: Relative Strength of Epistemic Systems Between S4 and S5

One of the important tasks of epistemic logic is to catalogue all
sound and complete systems of such logics in order to allow us to pick
the most ‘appropriate’ ones. The logics range from
**S4** over the intermediate systems
**S4.2**–**S4.4** to
**S5**. By way of example, Hintikka settled for
**S4** (1962), Kutschera argued for **S4.4**
(1976), Lenzen suggested **S4.2** (1978), van der Hoek
has proposed to strengthen knowledge according to system
**S4.3** (1996). van Ditmarsch, van der Hoek and Kooi
together with Fagin, Halpern, Moses and Vardi (Fagin *et
al*. 1995) and others assume knowledge to be **S5**
valid. Similar completeness cataloguing is available for belief where
axiom
T
is dropped and usually replaced by
D
(to avoid the condition of truth for belief but retain consistency
among beliefs) yieding systems like
**KD4**–**KD45** for belief. This also
paves the way for combining epistemic and doxastic systems and
for studying the interplay between knowledge and belief (see
Voorbraak 1993). Care should be taken however not to collapse
knowledge and belief in the combined systems as have been noted by
Lenzen (1978) and Stalnaker (1996), among others.

A particularly malignant philosophical problem for epistemic logic is
related to closure properties. Axiom
K,
can under certain circumstances be generalized to a closure property
for an agent's knowledge which is implausibly strong —
*logical omniscience*:

Whenever an agentcknows all of the formulas in a setΓand A follows logically fromΓ,thencalso knows A.

In particular, *c* knows all theorems (letting Γ =
ø), and he knows all logical consequences of any formula which
he knows (letting Γ consist of a single formula). There are
various ways of dealing with logical omniscience. Some of the first
proposals for solving the problem of logical omniscience introduce
semantical entities which explain why the agent appears to be, but in
fact is not really guilty of logical omniscience. These entities were
called ‘impossible possible worlds’ by Hintikka
(1975). The basic idea is that an agent may mistakenly count among the
worlds consistent with his or her knowledge, some worlds containing
logical contradictions. The mistake is simply a product of limited
resources; the agent may not be in a position to detect the
contradiction and may erroneously count them as genuine
possibilities. Similar entities called ‘seemingly
possible’ worlds are introduced by Rantala (1975) in his
urn-model analysis of logical omniscience. Allowing impossible
possible worlds or seemingly possible worlds in which the semantic
valuation of the formulas is arbitrary to a certain extent provides a
way of making the appearance of logical omniscience less
threatening. After all, on any realistic account of epistemic agency,
the agent is likely to consider (albeit inadvertantly) worlds in which
the laws of logic do not hold. Since no real epistemic principles hold
broadly enough to encompass impossible and seemingly possible worlds,
some conditions must be applied to epistemic models such that they
cohere with epistemic principles.

Computer scientists have proposed that what is being modelled in
epistemic logic is not knowledge *simpliciter* but a related
concept which is immune to logical omniscience. The epistemic operator
*K*_{c}*A* should be read as
‘agent *c* knows implicitly *A*’,
‘*A* follows from *c*'s knowledge’,
‘*A* is agent *c*'s possible knowledge’,
etc. Propositional attitudes like these should replace the usual
‘agent *c* knows *A*’. While there exists
some variation, the locutions all suggest modeling *implicit
knowledge* or what is implicitly represented in an agent's
information state rather than *explicit* knowledge (Fagin
*et al*. 1995, and others). The agents neither have to compute
knowledge nor can they be held responsible for answering queries based
on their knowledge under the implicit understanding of
knowledge. Logical omniscience is an epistemological condition for
implicit knowledge, but the agent may actually fail to realize this
condition.

## 2. Groups of Knowers

Single-agent systems may be extended to groups or multi-agent
systems. Following the standard treatment provided by Fagin, Halpern,
Moses and Vardi (Fagin *et al*. 1995) we can syntactically
augment the language of propositional logic with *n* knowledge
operators, one for each agent involved in the group of agents under
consideration. The primary difference between the semantics given for
a mono-agent and a multi-agent semantics is roughly that *n*
accessibility relations are introduced. A modal system for *n*
agents is obtained by joining together *n* modal logics where
for simplicity it may be assumed that the agents are homogenous in the
sense that they may all be described by the same logical system. An
epistemic logic for *n* agents consists of *n* copies of
a certain modal logic. In such an extended epistemic logic it is
possible to express that some agent in the group knows a certain fact,
that an agent knows that another agent knows a fact etc. It is
possible to develop the logic even further: Not only may an agent know
that another agent knows a fact, but they may all know this fact
simultaneously. From here it is possible to express that everyone
knows that everyone knows that everyone knows, that…. That it
is *common knowledge*.

As Lewis noted in his book *Convention* (1969) a convention
requires common knowledge among the agents that observe it. A variety
of norms, social and linguistic practices, agent interactions and
games presuppose common knowledge (Aumann 1994). A relatively simple
way of defining common knowledge is not to partition the group of
agents into subsets with different common ‘knowledges’ but
only to define common knowledge for the entire group of agents. Once
multiple agents have been added to the syntax, the language is
augmented with an additional operator *c*. *CA* is then
interpreted as ‘It is common knowledge among the agents that
*A*’. Well-formed formulas follow the standard recursive
recipe with a few, but obvious, modifications taking into account the
multiple agents. An auxiliary operator *E* is also introduced
such that *EA* means ‘Everyone knows that
*A*’. *EA* is defined as the conjunction
*K*_{1}*A*
∧
*K*_{2}*A*
∧
…
∧
*K*_{n}*A*.

To semantically interpret *n* knowledge operators, binary
accessibility relations *R*_{n} are defined
over the set of possible worlds *W*. A special accessibility
relation, *R*°, is introduced to interpret the operator of
common knowledge. The relation must be flexible enough to express the
relationship between individual and common knowledge. The idea is to
let the accessibility relation for *c* be the transitive
closure of the union of the accessibility relations corresponding to
the singular knowledge operators. The model
M
for an epistemic system with *n* agents and common knowledge is
accordingly a structure
M =
<*W*,*R*_{1},*R*_{2},…,*R*_{n},*R*°,φ>,
where *W* is a non-empty space of possible worlds,
*R*_{1},*R*_{2},…,*R*_{n},*R*°
are accessibility relations over *W* for which
*R*° = (*R*_{1} ∪
*R*_{2} ∪ … ∪
*R*_{n}) and φ again is the
denotation function assigning worlds to atomic propositional formula
φ : *atom*
*P*(*W*). The semantics for the Boolean connectives
remain intact. The formula *K*_{i}*A*
is true in a world *w*, i.e.,
M,*w*
⊨
*K*_{i}*A*
iff ∀*w*′∈*W* : if
*R*_{i}*ww*′,
then M,*w*′
⊨ *A*.
The formula *CA* is true in a world *w*, i.e.,
M,*w*
⊨ *CA* iff
*R*°*ww*′
implies
M,*w*′
⊨ *A*.
Varying the properties of the accessibility relations
*R*_{1},*R*_{2},…,*R*_{n},
as described above results in different epistemic logics. For instance
system **K** with common knowledge is determined by all
frames, while system **S4** with common knowledge is
determined by all reflexive and transitive frames. Similar results can
be obtained for the remaining epistemic logics (Fagin *et
al*. 1995).

## 3. Active Agenthood

A significant difference between alethic and epistemic logic is the
introduction of the agent *c* to the syntax. But what role does the
agent play in epistemic logic? At the early stages in the development
of the logic they primarily served as indices on the accessibility
relation between possible worlds. However, there is nothing
particularly epistemic about being an index, and epistemic logicians
soon began recognizing the central role of the agent much more
explicitly. An agent may have knowledge which is **S4.3**
valid thereby obtaining a certain epistemic strength. An important set
of questions seem to be *how* the agent has to *behave*
in order to gain the epistemic strength that he has. To make epistemic
logic pertinent to epistemology, computer science, artificial
intelligence and cognitive psychology the activity of agents must be
included in our formal considerations. The original symbolic notation
of a knowing agent also suggests this: An agent term should be inside
the scope of the knowledge operator — not outside as Hintikka
notes (1998). Inquiring agents are agents who read data, change their
minds, interact or have common knowledge, act according to strategies
and play games, have memory and act upon it, follow various
methodological rules, expand, contract or revise their knowledge
bases, etc. all in the pursuit of knowledge. Inquiring agents are
*active agents* (Hendricks 2003).

Game theory is about strategies for winning games in the context of
other agents. Game theory has therefore played a prominent role in
reflections on epistemic agency (the study of the behavior of
interactive epistemic agents). Aumann, van Benthem, Brandenburger,
Fagin, Halpern, Keisler, Moses, Stalnaker, Vardi and others have
demonstrated how logical epistemology uncovers important features of
*agent rationality* showing how game theory adds to the general
understanding of notions like knowledge, belief and belief
revision.^{[1]}
Baltag, Moss, Solecki combine epistemic logic with belief revision
theory to study actions and belief updates in games (Baltag *et
al*. 1999).

Mixing the theory of belief change and epistemic logic furnishes an illustrative example of active agents. The idea dates back to the mid 1990s. Alchourrón, Gärdenfors and Makinson's seminal belief revision theory (AGM) from the 1980s is a theory about the rational change of beliefs for expansions, contractions and revisions in light of new (possibly conflicting) evidence (Alchourrón 1985, Gärdenfors 1988). In 1994, de Rijke showed that the AGM-axioms governing expansion and revision may be translated into the object language of dynamic modal logic (de Rijke 1994). At about the same time, Segerberg demonstrated how the entire theory of belief revision could be formulated in modal logic.

Segerberg merged the static first generation doxastic logic with the
dynamics of belief change into ‘dynamic doxastic logic’
(Segerberg 1995). Doxastic operators in the logic of belief like
*B*_{c}*A* may be captured by AGM in
the sense that ‘*A* is in *c*'s belief-set
*T*’, or
¬*B*_{c}¬*A* becomes
‘¬*A* is not in *c*'s belief-set
*T*’. Similarly for other combinations of the belief
operator with negation. An immediate difference between the two
perspectives is that while AGM can express dynamic operations on
belief-sets like expansions (‘*A* is in *c*'s
belief-set *T* expanded by *D*’, i.e., *A*
∈ *T*+*D*), revisions (‘*A* is in
*c*'s belief-set *T* revised by *D*’, i.e.,
*A* ∈ *T***D*), and contractions
(‘*A* is in *c*'s belief-set *T* contracted
by *D*’, i.e. *A* ∈
*T*−*D*), no such dynamics are immediately
expressible in the standard language of doxastic logic. On the other
hand, action languages include operators like [ν] and <ν>
which are prefixed to a well-formed formula *A*. On Segerberg's
interpretation, [ν]*A* (<ν>*A*) mean that
‘after every (some) way of performing action ν it is the case
that *A*’. By introducing three new operators [+], [*],
and [−] into the doxastic language, the three dynamic operations
on belief-sets may be rendered as
[+*D*]*B*_{c}*A*,
[**D*]*B*_{c}*A* and
[−*D*]*B*_{c}*A*.

After revising the original belief revision theory such that changes
of beliefs happen in ‘hypertheories’ or concentric spheres
enumerated according to entrencement Segerberg (1999a, 199b) has
provided several axiomatizations of the dynamic doxastic logic
together with soundness and completeness results. The dynamic doxastic
logic paradigm may also be extended to iterated belief revision as
studied by Lindstrøm and Rabinowicz (1997) and accommodate
various forms of agent introspection. A related approach drawn up by
van Ditmarsch, van der Hoek and Kooi's new ‘dynamic epistemic
logic’ studies how information changes and how actions with
epistemic impact on agents may be modelled (Hoek *et al*. 2003,
Ditmarsch *et al*. 2006).

Active agenthood is also realizable directly on the agent level. One
may also choose to endow the agents with *epistemic capacities*
facilitating special epistemic behaviors. Fagin, Halpern, Moses and
Vardi have for instance considered ‘perfect recall’ (Fagin
*et al*. 1995): interacting agents' knowledge in the dynamic
system may increase as time goes by but the agents may still store old
information. The agent's current local state is an encoding of all
events that have happened so far in the run. Perfect recall is in turn
an epistemic recommendation telling the agent to remember his earlier
epistemic states.

There are other structural properties of agents being studied in the literature of dynamic epistemic logics. In an epistemic logic suited for modeling various games of imperfect information van Benthem refers to such properties as ‘styles of playing’ (van Benthem 2000). Properties like ‘bounded memory’, various ‘mechanisms for information updates’ and ‘uniform strategies’, infallibility, consistency etc. have been investigated. Agents as explcitly learning mechanims are also integral parts of Kelly's (1996) computational epistemology and a related approach called modal operator epistemology (Hendricks 2001, 2003).

Researchers in artificial intelligence have additionally been trying to describe and specify the behaviour of intelligent/rational agents by extensions of epistemic of logic by augmenting logics of time, action and belief with modalities for desires and intentions (see Meyer 2003), in particular, his discussion of the BDI-framework of Rao and Georgeff in Section 5.2).

## 4. Multi-Modalities

When epistemic logic was still in its infancy, Dana Scott noted:

Here is what I consider one of the biggest mistakes of all in modal logic: concentration on a system with just one modal operator. The only way to have any philosophically significant results in deontic logic or epistemic logic is to combine these operators with: Tense operators (otherwise how can you formulate principles of change?); the logical operators (otherwise how can you compare the relative with the absolute?); the operators like historical or physical necessity (otherwise how can you relate the agent to his environment?); and so on and so on. (Scott 1970, 143)

Nowadays, there are various ways in which multi-modalities may be
realized in epistemic logic. One standard way is to follow Fagin
*et al*. (1995). in reinterpreting agents and possible worlds
relative to systems of
agents.^{[2]}

In a system of agents each individual agent is considered to be in
some ‘local state’. The whole system — as the sum of
the local agents and other envrionmental features — is
accordingly in some `global state'. The dynamics may be modeled by
defining what is referred to as a ‘run’ over the system
which is a function from time to global states. The run may be
construed as an account of the behavior of the system for possible
executions. Pairs of runs and times give rise to `points'. For every
time, the system is in some global state as a function of the
particular time. The system may be thought of as a series of runs
rather than agents. In this case, what is being modeled are the
possible behaviors of the system over a collection of executions. A
system of this kind defines a Kripke-structure with an equivalence
relation over points. The accessibility relation is specified with
respect to possible points such that some point *w*′ is
accessible from the current point *w* if the agent is in the
same local state at *w* and *w*′. Knowledge is
defined with respect to the agents' local state. Truth of a formula is
given with respect to a point. If truth is relative to a point then
there is a question of *when* which opens up for the
introduction of temporal operators. One may for instance define a
universal future-tense operator such that a formula is true relative
to the current point and all later points. The mixture of epistemic
and temporal operators can handle claims about the temporal
development of knowledge in the system.

## 5. Epistemic Logic and Epistemology

Generally speaking, contemporary epistemology is organized around two major goals: (1) The long-standing goal of providing a definition of knowledge and simultaneously responding to the challenge of skepticism, and (2) The goal of modeling the dynamics of epistemic and doxastic states. The first of these goals has, for the most part, been a concern of philosophers who rely on thought experiments, traditional conceptual analysis or intuitions-based methods of various kinds. By contrast, philosophers working with epistemic logic have pursued the second goal. The apparent divergence of both enterprises can be reconciled to some extent once one recognizes that both goals relate to a third, and possibly more general problem, namely (3) the problem of understanding the rationality of inquiry. This problem is of equal importance to both epistemic logicians and traditional epistemologists. Dynamical treatments of epistemic logic and insights into the logic of inquiry from epistemic logicians speak directly to this third, unifying goal. In recent decades, it is precisely the dynamical model of knowledge and inquiry that has concerned philosophically-inclined epistemic logicians. For a systematic treatment of the interplay between epistemology and epistemic logic we refer to Hendricks and Symons 2006.

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## Other Internet Resources

- Chapter on Modal Epistemic Logic,
in Ho Ngoc Duc's thesis
*Resource Bounded Reasoning About Knowledge*(Universität Leipzig).