# Fuzzy Logic

*First published Tue Sep 3, 2002; substantive revision Wed Aug 4, 2010*

The term “fuzzy logic” emerged in the development of the
theory of fuzzy sets by Lotfi Zadeh (1965). A fuzzy subset *A*
of a (crisp) set *X* is characterized by assigning to each
element *x* of *X* the *degree of membership*
of *x* in *A* (e.g., *X* is a group of
people, *A* the fuzzy set of
*old* people in *X*). Now if *X* is a set of
propositions then its elements may be assigned their *degree of
truth*, which may be “absolutely true,” “absolutely
false” or some *intermediate* truth degree: a proposition
may be more true than another proposition. This is obvious in the
case of vague (imprecise) propositions like “this person is
old” (beautiful, rich, etc.). In the analogy to various
definitions of operations on fuzzy sets (intersection, union,
complement, …) one may ask how propositions can be combined by
*connectives* (conjunction, disjunction, negation, …) and
if the truth degree of a composed proposition is determined by the
truth degrees of its components, i.e. if the connectives have their
corresponding *truth functions* (like truth tables of classical
logic). Saying “yes” (which is the mainstream of fuzzy
logic) one accepts the truth-functional approach; this makes fuzzy
logic to something distinctly *different from probability
theory* since the latter is not truth-functional (the probability
of conjunction of two propositions is *not determined* by the
probabilities of those propositions).

Two main directions in fuzzy logic have to be distinguished (cf.
Zadeh 1994).
*Fuzzy logic in the broad sense* (older, better known, heavily
applied but not asking deep logical questions) serves mainly as
apparatus for fuzzy control, analysis of vagueness in natural language
and several other application domains. It is one of the techniques
of *soft-computing*, i.e. computational methods tolerant to
suboptimality and impreciseness (vagueness) and giving quick, simple
and *sufficiently good* solutions. The monographs Novak 1989,
Zimmermann 1991, Klir-Yuan 1996, Nguyen 1999 can serve as recommended
sources of information.

*Fuzzy logic in the narrow sense* is symbolic logic with a
comparative notion of truth developed fully in the spirit of classical
logic (syntax, semantics, axiomatization, truth-preserving deduction,
completeness, etc.; both propositional and predicate logic). It is a
branch of *many-valued logic* based on the paradigm
of *inference under vagueness*. This fuzzy logic is a
relatively young discipline, both serving as a foundation for the
fuzzy logic in a broad sense and of independent logical interest,
since it turns out that strictly logical investigation of this kind of
logical calculi can go rather far. A basic monograph is Hajek 1998,
further recommended monographs are Turunen 1999, Novak *et
al*. 2000; also recent monographs dealing with many-valued logic
(not specifically oriented to fuzziness), namely Gottwald 2001,
Cignoli *et al*. 2000a; are highly relevant.

The interested reader will find below some more information on fuzzy connectives and a survey of a logical system called basic fuzzy (propositional and predicate) logic together with three stronger systems — Łukasiewicz, Gödel and product logic; a short discussion on paradoxes and fuzzy logic; some comments on other formal systems of fuzzy logic, complexity and, finally, a few remarks on fuzzy computing and bibliography.

- 1. Fuzzy connectives
- 2. Basic fuzzy propositional logic
- 3. Basic fuzzy predicate logic
- 4. Łukasiewicz, Gödel and product logic
- 5. Fuzzy logic, paradoxes and probability
- 6. Other systems of fuzzy logic
- 7. On fuzzy computing
- 8. Complexity
- 9. Glossary
- Bibliography
- Academic Tools
- Other Internet Resources
- Related Entries

## 1. Fuzzy connectives

The *standard set of truth degrees* is the real interval [0,1]
with its natural ordering ≤ (1 standing for absolute truth, 0 for
absolute falsity); but one can work with different domains, finite or
infinite, linearly or partially ordered. Truth functions of
connectives have to
*behave classically on the extremal values* 0,1.

It is broadly accepted that *t-norms* (triangular norms) are
possible truth functions of *conjunction.* (A binary operation
* on the interval [0,1] is a *t*-norm if it is commutative,
associative, non-decreasing and 1 is its unit element. Minimum
(min(*x,y*) is the most popular *t*-norm. See the
Glossary at the end.) Dually, *t-conorms* serve as truth
functions of *disjunction.* See Klement *et al*. 2000
for an extensive theory of *t*-norms. The truth function
of *negation* has to be non-increasing (and assign 0 to 1 and
vice versa); the function 1 − *x* (Łukasiewicz
negation) is the best known candidate.

*Implication* is sometimes disregarded but is of fundamental
importance for fuzzy logic in the narrow sense. A straightforward but
logically less interesting possibility is to define implication from
conjunction and negation (or disjunction and negation) using the
corresponding tautology of classical logic; such implications are
called *S-implications.* More useful and interesting are
*R-implications:* an *R*-implication is defined as a
residuum of a *t*-norm; denoting the *t*-norm * and the
residuum → we have *x* → *y* =
max{*z*| *x***z* ≤ *y*}. This is
well-defined only if the *t*-norm is left-continuous.

## 2. Basic fuzzy propositional logic

Basic fuzzy propositional logic is the logic of
continuous
*t*-norms (developed in Hajek 1998). Formulas are built from
propositional variables using connectives & (conjunction), →
(implication) and truth constant 0 (denoting falsity). Negation ¬
φ is defined as φ → 0. Given a
continuous *t*-norm * (and hence its residuum →) each
evaluation *e* of propositional variables by truth degrees for
[0,1] extends uniquely to the evaluation
*e*_{*}(φ) of each formula φ using * and →
as truth functions of & and →.

A formula φ is a *t*-*tautology* or *standard
BL-tautology* if *e*_{*}(φ) = 1 for each
evaluation *e* and each continuous *t*-norm *. The
following *t*-tautologies are taken as *axioms of the
logic* BL:

(A1) (φ → ψ) → ((ψ → χ) → (φ → χ)) (A2) (φ & ψ) → φ (A3) (φ & ψ) → (ψ & φ) (A4) (φ & (φ → ψ)) → (ψ & (ψ → φ)) (A5a) (φ → (ψ → χ)) → ((φ & ψ) → χ) (A5b) ((φ & ψ) → χ) → (φ → (ψ → χ)) (A6) ((φ → ψ) → χ) → (((ψ → φ) → χ) → χ) (A7) 0 → φ

*Modus ponens* is the only deduction rule; this gives the
usual notion of proof and provability of the logic BL.
The *standard completeness theorem* (Cignoli *et
al*. 2000b) says that a formula φ is a *t*-tautology
iff it is provable in BL.

There is a more general semantics of BL, based on algebras called
*BL-algebras*; each
BL-algebra can serve as the algebra of truth functions of BL. The
* general completeness theorem* says that a formula
φ is provable in BL iff it is a general BL-tautology, i.e., a
tautology for each (linearly ordered) BL-algebra
**L**.

## 3. Basic fuzzy predicate logic

Basic fuzzy predicate logic has the same formulas as classical
predicate logic (they are built from predicates of arbitrary arity
using object variables, connectives &, →, truth constant 0
and quantifiers ∀, ∃. A *standard interpretation*
is given by a non-empty domain *M* and for each *n*-ary
predicate *P* by a *n*-ary fuzzy relation on *M*,
i.e., a mapping assigning to each *n*-tuple of elements of
*M* a truth value from [0,1] — the degree in which the
*n*-tuple satisfies the atomic formula
*P*(*x*_{1},…,*x*_{n}).
Given a continuous *t*-norm, this defines uniquely (in Tarski
style) the truth degree ||φ|| of each closed formula φ given
by the interpretation **M** and *t*-norm *. (The
degree of an universally quantified formula ∀*x*φ is
defined as the
infimum
of truth degrees of instances of φ; similarly
∃*x*φ and
supremum.
See the Glossary at the end of this entry.)

This generalizes in an appropriate manner to a so called *safe
interpretation* over any linearly ordered BL-algebra and
definition of the truth value ||φ||
_{M,L} given by the
**L**-interpretation **M**. A formula is a
*general* BL-*tautology* in the predicate logic
BL∀ if its truth value is 1 in each safe interpretation.

The following BL-tautologies are taken as axioms of BL∀: (a) axioms of the propositional logic BL, and

(∀1) ∀ xφ(x) → φ(y)(∃1) φ( y) → ∃xφ(x)(∀2) ∀ x(χ→ψ) → (χ → ∀xψ)(∃2) ∀ x(φ → χ) → (∃xφ → χ)(∀3) ∀ x(φ ∨ χ) → (∀xφ ∨ χ)(where

yis substitutable forxinto φ andxis not free in χ).

Deduction rules are modus ponens and generalization as in classical logic.

The *general completeness theorem* says that a formula is
provable in the fuzzy predicate logic BL∀ iff it is a general
BL-tautology (of predicate logic). This generalizes in a natural way
to provability in a theory over BL∀ and truth in all models of
the theory. But note
that *standard* BL-tautologies, i.e., formulas true in all
standard interpretations w.r.t. all continuous *t*-norms are
not recursively axiomatizable (see Montagna 2001 for the
final result).

From recent important and general papers we recommend Cintula &
Hajek 2010a, Esteva *et al*. 2009,
Metcalfe *et al*. 2008 and Montagna 2005.

## 4. Łukasiewicz, Gödel and product logic

The following table presents three most important continuous
*t*-norms, their residua and the corresponding negation:

They define three corresponding notions of tautology (being true in
each evaluation with respect to the *t*-norm — standard
Ł-tautologies, G-tautologies and Π-tautologies.) On the level
of propositional logic they are completely axiomatized as follows:

Ł — BL plus the axiom ¬¬φ → φ of double negation, G — BL plus the axiom φ → (φ & φ) of idempotence of conjunction, Π — BL plus the axiom ¬¬φ → ((φ→ (φ & ψ)) → (ψ & ¬¬ψ)).

This is *standard completeness*; we have also * general
completeness* with respect to BL-algebras satisfying the
corresponding additional conditions (making the additional axioms
true): they are called MV-algebras (for Ł), G-algebras (for G)
and product algebras (for Π) The corresponding predicate logics
Ł∀, G∀, Π∀ are extensions of the basic
predicate fuzzy logic BL∀ by the just formulated axioms
characterizing Ł, G, Π.

Analogously to BL∀ we have the *general completeness*
heorem for predicate logics: provability = general validity; for
G∀ we have also *standard completeness*, but neither
standard L∀-tautologies nor standard Π∀-tautologies
are recursively axiomatizable.

Among important recent papers, we should mention Cintula & Hajek 2009.

## 5. Fuzzy logic, paradoxes and probability

In classical logic, the liar paradox (sentence asserting its own
falsity) relies on the fact that no formula can be equivalent to its
own negation. In Łukasiewicz logic this is not the case: if
φ has the value 0.5 then its negation ¬φ has the same
value and is equivalent to φ. But one may ask if one can add to
(classical) arithmetic a fuzzy truth predicate *Tr* satisfying,
for formulas of this extended language, the *disquotation
schema*

φ ≡Tr(φ), (whereφdenotes the Gödel number of φ)

The answer is “yes and no”: you get a theory which is
consistent but has no model expanding the standard natural
numbers. This is discussed in Hajek *et al*. 2000; see also
Grim *et al*. 1992.

The *Sorites paradox* is
related to notions like small, many etc.; considering them to be crisp
(two-valued) leads to unnatural consequences. We shall sketch a
treatment of the notion “small number” in fuzzy
logic. (See Goguen 1968–69 for a “classic”
analysis.) Without going into detail, imagine a theory inside fuzzy
predicate calculus (BL∀ or other) containing crisp arithmetic
of natural numbers (as above) and an additional
predicate *Small* with the axioms saying that 0 is small
(*Small*(0)), that *Small* respects ≤, i.e.,

∀x,y(x≤y→ (Small(y) →Small(x))),

and that for all *x*, the implication
*Small*(*x*)→*Small*(*x*+1)
is *almost true*; finally that there is a non small number,
∃*x*¬*Small*(*x*). The
“induction” condition can be expressed in various ways,
e.g.,

∀xAt(Small(x) →Small(x+1))

where *At* is an unary connective “almost true”.
Its truth function has to satisfy some natural conditions, in
particular *u→At(u)*. You can have *At* definable,
introducing a new propositional constant *r* that should be
interpreted by a truth value near to 1 and defining *At*φ
to be *r*→φ, thus the above formula becomes

∀x(r→ (Small(x) →Small(x+1))), or equivalently

∀x((Small(x) &r) →Small(x+1)).

You see that the theory admits many interpretations (and hence is
consistent). All interpretations satisfy in some sense the following:
the truth degree of *Small*(*x*+1) is only slightly less
than (or equal to) the truth degree of
*Small*(*x*). Thus the paradox can be handled in the
frame of fuzzy logic in an axiomatic way, not enforcing any unique
semantics. The semantics need not be numerical and the truth values
need not be linearly ordered (there are BL algebras whose order is not
linear).

For the liar paradox and fuzzy logic
see Hajek *et al*. 2000 and for Sorites
paradox and fuzzy logic see Hajek & Novak 2003.

Several other notions can be handled similarly; for example the fuzzy
notion *probably* can be axiomatized as a *fuzzy
modality*. Having a probability on Boolean formulas, define for
each such formula φ a new formula Pφ, read “probably
φ”, and define the truth value of Pφ to be the
probability of φ. One gets a reasonably elegant bridge between
fuzziness and probability, with a simple axiom system over
Łukasiewicz logic. See Hajek 1998.

## 6. Other systems of fuzzy logic

We mention a few:

*Pavelka's logic*. (Łukasiewicz with rational truth constants; see Pavelka 1979, Novak*et al*. 2000; V. Novak systematically develops this logic as a logic with evaluated syntax (working with pairs (*formula, truth value*)), fuzzy theories (sets of evaluated formulas) and fuzzy modus ponens [*from*(φ,*u*), (φ→ψ,*v*) derive (ψ,*u***v*) where * is Łukasiewicz*t*-norm]. This has excellent properties thanks to the fact that Łukasiewicz t-norm is the only continuous t-norm whose residuum is continuous. Expansions of other logics with truth constants were studied in Esteva*et al*. 2009 and Savicky*et al*. 2006.*Expansions of basic logic BL by aditional connectives*. These include logics with an additional involutive negation (Esteva*et al*. 2000), and logics putting Łukasiewicz and product logic together (Esteva & Godo 1999, Cintula 2001, Cintula 2003, Horcik & Citula 2004).The

*monoidal t-norm based logic*MTL. Introduced in Esteva & Godo 2001 as well as its predicate variant MTL∀. This is a generalization of the logic BL — a logic of left continuous t-norms. It has stronger variants IMTL and ΠMTL generalizing the Łukasiewicz and product logic. These logics are (strongly) complete with respect to corresponding algebras. For results on standard completeness of these logics, see Jenei & Montagna 2002 and (for ΠMTL) Horcik 2005.*Fuzzy logics with non-commutative conjunction*. (φ&ψ not necessarily equivalent to ψ&φ). For details see di Nola*et al*. 2002, Hajek 2003, and for standard completeness, Jenei & Montagna 2003.*Fuzzy logic and vagueness*. Is fuzzy logic a logic of vague notions? This is discussed; there are two monographs on vagueness written by philosophers, Shapiro 2006 and Smith 2008. They also discuss the relation of vagueness to truth degrees (fuzziness). Shapiro is rather negative but Smith is open and positive. Let's mention two papers: Fermüller 2003 and Hajek 2009a.*Axiomatic fuzzy set theory*. Let us mention two important approaches: first, an axiomatic theory (over a fuzzy predicate logic) which should be analogous to the classical Zermelo-Fraenkel set theory. This is well possible - see Hajek & Hanikova 2003. Another very interesting approach is to have a theory (over Łukasiewicz predicate logic) which would have full comprehension — each formula determines a set of all elements satisfing the formula. Over classical logic this is contradictory (Russel's paradox), but over Łukasiewicz it is consistent (Cantor-Łukasiewicz set theory), as was proved by White 1979. It is very interesting to investigate what can one prove on natural numbers in this set theory, see e.g. Hajek 2005b and Yatabe 2005, 2007, 2009.

To close this section let us mention a very general treatment of fuzzy logics in the frame of the so-called weakly implicative logics presented in Cintula 2006.

## 7. On fuzzy computing

We briefly comment on so-called fuzzy IF-THEN rules as an example of
fuzzy logic in a broad sense. They may be understood as partial
imprecise knowledge on some crisp function and have (in the simplest
case) the form IF *x* is *A*_{i} THEN
*y* is *B _{i}*. They should

**not**be immediately understood as implications; think of a

*table*relating values of a (dependent) variable

*y*to values of an (independent variable)

*x*:

xA_{1}… A_{n}yB_{1}… B_{n}

*A*_{i}, *B*_{i} may
be crisp (concrete numbers) or fuzzy (small, medium, …) It may be
understood in two, in general non-equivalent ways:

(1) as a listing
of *n* possibilities, called Mamdani's formula:

MAMD(x,y)≡ n

∨

i=1( A_{i}(x) &B_{i}(y)).

(where *x* is *A*_{1} and *y* is
*B*_{1} *or* *x* is
*A*_{2} and *y* is *B*_{2} or
…).

(2) as a conjunction of implications:

RULES(x,y)≡ n

∧

i=1( A_{i}(x) →B_{i}(y)).

(if *x* is *A*_{1} then *y* is
*B*_{1} *and* …).

Both *MAMD* and *RULES* define a binary fuzzy relation
(given the interpretation of *A*_{i}s,
*B*_{i}s and truth functions of
connectives). Now given a *fuzzy input*
*A*^{*}(*x*) one can consider the image
*B*^{*} of *A*^{*}(*x*) under
this relation, i.e.,

B^{*}(y) ≡ ∃x(A(x) &R(x,y)),

where *R*(*x*,*y*) is
*MAMD*(*x*,*y*) (most frequent case) or
*RULES*(*x*,*y*). Thus one gets an operator
assigning to each fuzzy input set *A*^{*} a
corresponding fuzzy output *B*^{*}. Usually this is
combined with some *fuzzifications* converting a crisp input
*x*_{0} to some fuzzy
*A*^{*}(*x*) (saying something as “*x* is
similar to *x*_{0}”) and a *defuzzification*
converting the fuzzy image *B*^{*} to a crisp output
*y*_{0}. Thus one gets a crisp function; its relation
to the set of rules may be analyzed. For detailed information on fuzzy
control see Driankov *et al*. 1993. (But be sure *not*
to call minimum “Mamdani implication” — minimum is
not an implication at all! For logical analysis, see e.g., Hajek
2000.)

## 8. Complexity

For propositional logics it is always a natural question whether a
logic is decidable, i.e., whether its set of tautologies is recursive,
and if it is, whether it is in co-NP (its complement being
non-neterministically computable in polynomial time). Similarly for
the set of satisfiable formulas and NP. (Also sets of positive
tautologies, i.e. formulas having a positive value in each evaluation
and positively satisfiable formulas are discussed.) It has been shown
that for our logics tautologies are co-NP-complete (of maximal
complexity in co-NP) and satisfiable formulas are NP-complete. See
Baaz *et al*. 2002 and Hanikova 2002 for final results.

The corresponding predicate logics are undecidable (as is the
classical predicate logic) but of various degree of undecidability in
the sense of so-called arithmetical hierarchy of
Σ_{n}-sets and
Π_{n}-sets. For the reader knowing this hierarchy
we mention that for example the set of standard predicate tautologies
of Gödel logic is Σ_{1}-complete, for
Łukasiewicz it is Π_{2}-complete and for product logic
it is non-arithmetical (outside the arithmetical hierarchy). Not
surprisingly, the set of general predicate tautologies of each of
these logics is Σ_{1}-complete (due to completeness
theorem). Much more is known; see Hajek 2005 for a survey of known
results. Most difficult results on non-arithmeticity were obtained by
Montagna 2001 and Montagna 2005.

For a recent and important contribution, see Montagna & Noguera 2010.

## 9. Glossary

To help the reader not familiar with the basic notions of higher mathematics, we describe two notions used:

*Continuous t-norm*. A *t*-norm is a particular operation
*x***y* with arguments and values in the real unit
interval [0,1]. Such an operation is *continuous,* intuitively
speaking, if small changes of the arguments lead only to small changes
of the result of the operation. Precisely, for each ε > 0
there is a δ > 0 such that wherever |*x*_{1}
− *x*_{2}| < δ and
|*y*_{1} − *y*_{2}| < δ
then |(*x*_{1}**y*_{1}) −
(*x*_{2}**y*_{2})| < ε.

*Infimum and supremum* of a subset of the real unit interval
[0,1]. Let *A* be a set of truth values, hence a subset of
[0,1]. A truth value *x* is a *lower bound* of
*A* if *x* ≤ *y* for each element *y*
of *A*; it is the *infimum* of *A* if it is the
largest lower bound (notation: *x* = inf(*A*)).
Clearly, if *A* has a least element then this element is its
infimum; but if *A* has no least element then its infimum is
not its element. For example if *A* is the set of all positive
truth values (*x* > 0) then inf(*A*)=0. Dually,
*x* is an *upper bound* of *A* if *x* ≥
*y* for all *y* in *A*; the *supremum* of
*A* is its least upper bound.

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