## Notes to Logic and Information

1. The issue turns on
modelling *inferential information*—the agent possessing
the reasoning skills required to move information form implicit to
explicit storage. Models for inferential information for non-ideal
agents will be explored in sections below, but for now we note that
reasoning is just one type of *informational action*—an
action-type dedicated to “transporting”
information. Another type of informational action is that of
an *announcement* .

2. Although a serious comparison lies outside the scope of this entry, DEL has deep connections with dynamic semantics, and the point above is very close in spirit to the insight that “the utterance of a sentence brings us from a certain state of information to another one”, from the Dynamic Predicate Logic (DPL) of Groenendijk and Stokhof (1991). For further information, see van Eijck and Visser (2012).

3. Readers familiar with
model theory may have noticed that the ‘part-of’ relation
described here is a generalization of the notion of theory
interpretation —just consider the case when the instances of the
two classifications **A**, **C** are the
models of two first order
theories *T*_{A}, *T*_{B},
respectively, and the types are the sentences of the language of the
corresponding theory.”

4. In general, the
definition of *L*_{A} can be made more
sophisticated, allowing for constraints of a more elaborated form than
the simple two-type ones used in this discussion.

5. In other words, the
Strong Commutation rule is derived. Strong commutation follows from
commutation and association: From (*A* ⊗ *B*)
⊗ *D* we can associate to get *A* ⊗ (*B*
⊗ *D*), then commute to get *A* ⊗ (*D*
⊗ *B*), associating again to get (*A*
⊗ *D*) ⊗ *B*. In non-associating logics with
commutation, commutation is restricted to left-right swaps within the
parameters of a given bracketing. In this case, from (*A*
⊗ *B*) ⊗ *D* we could get only (*B*
⊗ *A*) ⊗ *D*, *D* ⊗ (*A*
⊗ *B*), and *D* ⊗ (*B*
⊗ *A*). Since non-associative logics with commutation are
rare, commutation appears usually in its stronger, derived form. In
non-associating logics with commutation, commutation is restricted to
left-right swaps within the parameters of a given bracketing.

6. Floridi uses *U*
instead of *N*, but we have changed the notations here so as to
guard against confusion with regard to the universal modality in
situation semantics.