#### Supplement to Logic and Information

## Abstract Approaches to Information Structure

The material in the section constitutes some major instances very abstract approaches to information structure. The abstractness means that many connections with topics from the previous sections can be made, with no one connection being exclusive enough to warrant the material be placed in any one section as apposed to some other.

### Intuitionistic logic, Beth and Kripke models

Consider again the waiter-at-the-cafe example
from section 1. We noted that it
was the verbal interaction between several agents that facilitated the
information flow that enabled the logical reasoning to be
undertaken. Along with verbal interactions, there was another type of
epistemic action crucial for execution of the dynamic reasoning
procedure undertaken by the waiter, *observation*. Simply put,
the waiter observed the coffees in his possession (and presumable the
ticket with the table number and so forth), and these observations
facilitated information flow between the waiter and the waiter's
physical environment, and this information flow too played a necessary
role in enabling the waiter's actions.

Beth models for constructive logic are needed when modelling the
information update from observations in order that the primeness of
disjunction be circumvented (see the following paragraph for an
example of why it is that we should want to circumvent it). A
disjunction operation is said to be *prime* when it obeys the
conditions specified by (23) below. To see why this is a problem,
consider the standard Kripke models for constructive logic:

- (21)
*x*⊩*A*→*B*iff for all*y*∈**F**, s.t.*x*⊑*y*, if*y*⊩*A*then*y*⊩*B*- (22)
*x*⊩*A*∧*B*iff*x*⊩*A*and*x*⊩*B*- (23)
*x*⊩*A*∨*B*iff*x*⊩*A*or*x*⊩*B*

Take the states of *S* to be stages of a scientific research
project. Now consider (21). (21) makes sense on this
interpretation. It means simply that *A* → *B* has been
established at a particular stage *x* in a research project iff
at any future stage *y* in our project, if α has
established *A*, then α has established *B*. (22)
makes sense under this interpretation, however (23) does not. (23)
does not make sense because knowledge is not *prime* in the
sense of (23). Clearly, *K*_{α}(*A*
∨ *B*) does *not* imply
that *either* *K*_{α}*A* *or* *K*_{α}*B*
(see Beal and Restall 2006). In order to take care of this, we need a
frame construction with different disjunction conditions.

The original (and arguably most straightforward) way to take care
of this is via *Beth frames* (Beth 1955, 1956). The conceptual
motivation behind Beth's disjunction condition is
straightforward. Beth's disjunction condition states that *x*
⊩ *A* ∨ *B* iff either *A*
or *B* *will* be established at some stage, where this
stage is an informational development of *x*. In other words,
if *K*_{α}(*A* ∨ *B*), then α
will establish *A* or establish *B* at a future stage of the
research project. Note that this assumes logical omniscience on behalf
of α. To get off the ground formally, we need to introduce
(information-)*chains* and (information-)*bars*:

**Chains:**Take an information frame**F**:= ⟨*S*, ⊑⟩. A subset*s*of this partial order ⊑ will be*totally ordered*iff for all*x*,*y*∈*s*, either*x*⊑*y*or*y*⊑*x*.*s*will be*maximally totally ordered*iff*s*is totally ordered, and there is no*y*∈**F**such that*y*∉*s*and*s*∪ {*y*} is a total order also.*s*is a**chain**when*s*is a maximal total order.**Bars:***A*subset*s*′ ⊂*S***bars**an information state*x*iff every chain*s*through*x*intersects*s*′.

The Beth model for disjunction (where ⟦.⟧ is an evaluation function) is as follows:

- (24)
*x*⊩*A*∨*B*iff ⟦*A*⟧ ∪ ⟦*B*⟧ bars*x*

That is, for any possible course of research through *x*
(i.e., on any chain through *x*) either *A* will be
established or *B* will be established. The other connectives
remain the same, with the caveat the propositions are closed under
barring. That is, we get *x*
∈ ⟦*A*⟧
whenever we have it for some *x*
that ⟦*A*⟧
bars *x*. This makes sense on our interpretation, since if
α knows that *A* will be established at *any* stage
of research extending the present stage, then α will have
established *A* at the present stage.

Considerable work has been done in order to reveal the connections between modal information theory and constructive logic systems by van Benthem (2009). van Benthem begins by taking an informationalised model condition for the universal modality to be the following:

- (25)
*x*⊩□ φ iff φ is true at all future states*y*⊒*x*

From here van Benthem may define constructive implication with the
informationalised universal modal operator as □(φ →
ψ). Atomic propositions are upwardly preserved due to the addition
of the atomic persistence law *p* →□*p*. The
existential modal operator ◊ is not persistent however, as facts
higher up the information ordering may negate any proposition falling
within the scope of ◊. Hence there is no constructive counterpart
to the existential modality, and “Modulo a few technicalities,
the intuitionistic language is the ‘persistent fragment’
of the modal one….”, van Benthem (2009: 257). In this
case, we have a single constructive logic/modal logic framework that
contains multiple views of informational processes.

### Algebraic and Other Approaches to Modal Information Theory and Related Areas.

Sadrzadeh (2009) develops algebraically an expressively rich modal logic for multi-agent information flow that rejects the necessity of positive introspection, negative introspection, and the T-axiom:

- (26)
*K*_{α}φ ⇒*K*_{α}*K*_{α}φ- (27)
- ¬
*K*_{α}φ ⇒*K*_{α}¬*K*_{α}φ - (28)
*K*_{α}φ ⇒ φ

Although the rejection of the *T*-axiom seems odd at first,
owing to the factive nature of knowledge, Sadrzadeh is not working
with knowledge and belief, but with their weaker
relatives, *appearance* (things appear to α to be thus
and so) and *information* (α receives the possible false
information) from which knowledge and belief may be gotten
respectively if certain extra conditions are imposed.

Sadrzadeh's motivation is to identify the minimal logical
structures which allow for a compositional analysis of the epistemic
actions (observations and announcements) which underpin the
information flow at work. This is accomplished by the actions being
understood as functions that take an agent (or groups of agents or
parts of groups of agents) from one state (or certain states) of
information to another (or others). Hence action composition is
understood as an instance of function composition, and the algebraic
semantics is lifted to the powerful compositional framework provided
by *category theory* (see
section 4.2
for further connections between category theory and the
situation theory expounded
in section 2). Sadrzadeh's work
is extended in Dyckhoff and Sadrzadeh (2010). Related work on an
algebraic analysis of information update via epistemic actions, where
such epistemic actions are understood as *resources* may be
found in Baltag, Coeke, and Sadrzadeh (2007). For still further
connections between modal logical and category theoretical notions
such as coalgebras, fixpoint theory, and bisimulation with information
flow. For an extension of the logical approach to the analysis of
information flow via the logical apparatus of channel theory, see
Seligman (2009).

A related modal informational framework for *being
informed* is developed by Floridi (2006). Like Sadrzadeh and
Dyckhoff, Floridi rejects the introspection axioms, however he retains
an informational version of the *T*-axiom. This is due to Floridi
working with his veridical notion of strongly semantic information,
expounded in section 1.3. Floridi's
full logic of being informed is the modal logic KTB, which,
reading *I*_{α}φ as α *is informed
that* *A*, takes as informationalised axioms the
following:

- (29)
*I*φ → φ- (30)
*I*(φ → ψ) → (*I*φ →*I*ψ)- (31)
*NI*φ → φ- (32)
- ⊢ φ, ⊢ φ → ψ ⇒ ⊢ ψ
- (33)
- ⊢ φ ⇒ ⊢
*I*φ

*U* is the dual existential modality to *I*, that
is, *N*_{α}φ :=
¬*I*_{α}¬φ, read as
α *is uninformed*, or *for all* α*'s
information, it is possible that*
φ.^{[6]} (Note
that *NI*φ → φ is the derivable-in-KTB dual to the
usual KTB axiom: φ → *NI*φ.)

Floridi's logic of being informed is a static system. It models
the results of cognitive procedures rather than the properties of the
cognitive procedures that bring these results about. However, Floridi
is aware of the connections between KTB and constructive logics, and
Primiero (2006, 2008) extends Floridi's work into a type-theoretical
constructive framework for *becoming* informed.

Another type-theoretical approach is Duzi's (2010)
type-theoretical approach. Duzi distinguishes between what she
calls *empirical* and *analytic* information. As one
would expect, empirical information is that which is gotten *a
posteriori*, and analytic information is that which is
gotten *a priori*. Logically true sentences and logical
inferences convey the same empirical information, but their analytic
information may differ. Analytic information is procedural information
in the sense that it is individuated via the constructive procedures
which take the reasoner to the truths in question. Duzi's work is
extended extensively in Duzi, Jespersen, and Materna 2010.