# Time Machines

*First published Thu Nov 25, 2004; substantive revision Thu Oct 7, 2010*

Recent years have seen a growing consensus in the philosophical community that the grandfather paradox and similar logical puzzles do not preclude the possibility of time travel scenarios that utilize spacetimes containing closed timelike curves. At the same time, physicists, who for half a century acknowledged that the general theory of relativity is compatible with such spacetimes, have intensely studied the question whether the operation of a time machine would be admissible in the context of the same theory and of its quantum cousins. A time machine is a device which brings about closed timelike curves—and thus enables time travel—where none would have existed otherwise. The physics literature contains various no-go theorems for time machines, i.e., theorems which purport to establish that, under physically plausible assumptions, the operation of a time machine is impossible. We conclude that for the time being there exists no conclusive no-go theorem against time machines. The character of the material covered in this article makes it inevitable that its content is of a rather technical nature. We contend, however, that philosophers should nevertheless be interested in this literature for at least two reasons. First, the topic of time machines leads to a number of interesting foundations issues in classical and quantum theories of gravity; and second, philosophers can contribute to the topic by clarifying what it means for a device to count as a time machine, by relating the debate to other concerns such as Penrose's cosmic censorship conjecture and the fate of determinism in general relativity theory, and by eliminating a number of confusions regarding the status of the paradoxes of time travel. The present article addresses these ambitions in as non-technical a manner as possible, and the reader is referred to the relevant physics literature for details.

- 1. Introduction: time travel vs. time machines
- 2. What is a (Thornian) time machine? Preliminaries
- 3. When can a would-be time machine be held responsible for the emergence of CTCs?
- 4. No-go results for (Thornian) time machines in classical general relativity theory
- 5. No-go results in quantum gravity
- 6. Conclusion
- Bibliography
- Academic Tools
- Other Internet Resources
- Related Entries

## 1. Introduction: time travel vs. time machine

The topic of time machines is the subject of a sizable and growing
physics literature, some of which has filtered down to popular and
semi-popular
presentations.^{[1]}
The issues raised by this topic are largely oblique, if not
orthogonal, to those treated in the philosophical literature on time
travel.^{[2]}
Most significantly, the so-called paradoxes of time travel do not
play a substantial role in the physics literature on time machines.
This literature equates the possibility of time travel with the
existence of closed timelike curves (CTCs) or worldlines for material
particles that are smooth, future-directed timelike curves with
self-intersections.^{[3]}
Since time machines designate devices which bring about the existence
of CTCs and thus enable time travel, the paradoxes of time travel are
irrelevant for attempted “no-go” results for time
machines because these results concern what happens before the
emergence of
CTCs.^{[4]}
This, in our opinion, is fortunate since the paradoxes of time travel
are nothing more than a crude way of bringing out the fact that the
application of familiar local laws of relativistic physics to a
spacetime background which contains CTCs typically requires that
consistency constraints on initial data must be met in order for a
local solution of the laws to be extendable to a global solution. The
nature and status of these constraints is the subject of ongoing
discussion. We will not try to advance the discussion of this issue
here;^{[5]}
rather, our aim is to acquaint the reader with the issues addressed
in the physics literature on time machines and to connect them with
issues in the philosophy of space and time and, more generally, with
issues in the foundations of physics.

Paradox mongers can be reassured in that if a paradox is lost in shifting the focus from time travel itself to time machines, then a paradox is also gained: if it is possible to operate a time machine device that produces CTCs, then it is possible to alter the structure of spacetime such that determinism fails; but by undercutting determinism, the time machine undercuts the claim that it is responsible for producing CTCs. But just as the grandfather paradox is a crude way of making a point, so this new paradox is a crude way of indicating that it is going to be difficult to specify what it means to be a time machine. This is a task that calls not for paradox mongering but for scientifically informed philosophizing. The present article will provide the initial steps of this task and will indicate what remains to be done. But aside from paradoxes, the main payoff of the topic of time machines is that it provides a quick route to the heart of a number of foundations problems in classical general relativity theory and in attempts to produce a quantum theory of gravity by combining general relativity and quantum mechanics. We will indicate the shape of some of these problems here, but will refer the interested reader elsewhere for technical details.

There are at least two distinct general notions of time machines,
which we will call *Wellsian* and *Thornian* for short.
In *The Time Machine*, H. G. Wells (1931) described what has
become science fiction's paradigmatic conception of a time machine:
the intrepid operator fastens her seat belt, dials the target
date—past or future—into the counter, throws a lever, and
sits back while time rewinds or fast forwards until the target date
is reached. We will not broach the issue of whether or not a Wellsian
time machine can be implemented within a relativistic spacetime
framework. For, as will soon become clear, the time machines which
have recently come into prominence in the physics literature are of
an utterly different kind. This second kind of time machine was
originally proposed by Kip Thorne and his collaborators (see Morris
and Thorne 1988; Morris, Thorne, and Yurtsever 1988). These articles
considered the possibility that, without violating the laws of
general relativistic physics, an advanced civilization might
manipulate concentrations of matter-energy so as to produce CTCs
where none would have existed otherwise. In their example, the
production of “wormholes” was used to generate the
required spacetime structure. But this is only one of the ways in
which a time machine might operate, and in what follows any device
which affects the spacetime structure in such a way that CTCs result
will be dubbed a *Thornian time machine*. We will only be
concerned with this variety of time machine, leaving the Wellsian
variety to science fiction writers. This will disappoint the
aficionados of science fiction since Thornian time machines do not
have the magical ability to transport the would-be time traveler to
the past of the events that constitute the operation of the time
machine. For those more interested in science than in science
fiction, this loss is balanced by the gain in realism and the
connection to contemporary research in physics.

In Sections 2 and 3 we investigate the circumstances under which it is plausible to see a Thornian time machine at work. The main difficulty lies in specifying the conditions needed to make sense of the notion that the time machine “produces” or is “responsible for” the appearances of CTCs. We argue that at present there is no satisfactory resolution of this difficulty and, thus, that the topic of time machines in a general relativistic setting is somewhat ill-defined. This fact does not prevent progress from being made on the topic; for if one's aim is to establish no-go results for time machines it suffices to identify necessary conditions for the operation of a time machine and then to prove, under suitable hypotheses about what is physically possible, that it is not physically possible to satisfy said necessary conditions. In Section 4 we review various no-go results which depend only on classical general relativity theory. Section 5 surveys results that appeal to quantum effects. Conclusions are presented in Section 6.

## 2. What is a (Thornian) time machine? Preliminaries

The setting for the discussion is a *general relativistic
spacetime*
(M, *g _{ab}*) where
M is a differentiable manifold and

*g*is a Lorentz signature metric defined on all of M. The central issue addressed in the physics literature on time machines is whether in this general setting it is physically possible to operate a Thornian time machine. This issue is to be settled by proving theorems about the solutions to the equations that represent what are taken to be physical laws operating in the general relativistic setting—or at least this is so once the notion of a Thornian time machine has been explicated. Unfortunately, no adequate and generally accepted explication that lends itself to the required mathematical proofs is to be found in the literature. This is neither surprising nor deplorable. Mathematical physicists do not wait until some concept has received its final explication before trying to prove theorems about it; indeed, the process of theorem proving is often an essential part of conceptual clarification. The moral is well illustrated by the history of the concept of a spacetime singularity in general relativity where this concept received its now canonical definition only in the process of proving the Penrose-Hawking-Geroch singularity theorems, which came at the end of a decades long dispute over the issue of whether spacetime singularities are a generic feature of solutions to Einstein's gravitational field equations.

_{ab}^{[6]}However, this is not to say that philosophers interested in time machines should simply wait until the dust has settled in the physics literature; indeed, the physics literature could benefit from deployment of the analytical skills that are the stock in trade of philosophy. For example, the paradoxes of time travel and the fate of time machines are not infrequently confused in the physics literature, and as will become evident below, subtler confusions abound as well.

The question of whether a Thornian time machine—a device that
produces CTCs—can be seen to be at work only makes sense if the
spacetime has at least three features: temporal orientability, a
definite time orientation, and a causally innocuous past. In order to
make the notion of a CTC meaningful, the spacetime must be
*temporally orientable* (i.e., must admit a consistent time
directionality), and one of the two possible time orientations has to
be singled out as giving *the* direction of
time.^{[7]}
Non-temporal orientability is not really an obstacle since if a given
general relativistic spacetime is not temporally orientable, a
spacetime that is everywhere locally the same as the given spacetime
and is itself temporally orientable can be obtained by passing to a
covering
spacetime.^{[8]}
How to justify the singling out of one of the two possible
orientations as future pointing requires a solution to the problem of
the direction of time, a problem which is still subject to lively
debate (see Callender 2001). But for present purposes we simply
assume that a temporal orientation has been provided. A CTC is then
(by definition) a parameterized closed spacetime curve whose tangent
is everywhere a future-pointing timelike vector. A CTC can be thought
of as the world line of some possible observer whose life history is
linearly ordered in the small but not in the large: the observer has
a consistent experience of the “next moment,” and the
“next,” etc., but eventually the “next
moment” brings her back to whatever event she regards as the
starting point.

As for the third condition—a causally innocuous past—the
question of the possibility of operating a device that produces CTCs
presupposes that there is a time before which no CTCs existed. Thus,
Gödel spacetime, so beloved of the time travel literature, is
not a candidate for hosting a Thornian time machine since through
every point in this spacetime there is a CTC. We make this third
condition precise by requiring that the spacetime admits a *global
time slice* Σ (i.e., a spacelike hypersurface without
edges);^{[9]}
that Σ is two-sided and partitions
M into three parts—Σ itself,
the part of
M on the past side of Σ and the
part of
M on the future side of
Σ—and that there are no CTCs that lie on the past side of
Σ. The first two clauses of this requirement together entail
that the time slice Σ is a *partial Cauchy surface*,
i.e., Σ is a time slice that is not intersected more than once
by any future-directed timelike
curve.^{[10]}

Now suppose that the state on a partial Cauchy surface
Σ_{0} with no CTCs to its past is to be thought of as
giving a snapshot of the universe at a moment before the machine is
turned on. The subsequent realization of a Thornian time machine
scenario requires that the *chronology violating region*
*V* ⊆
M, the region of spacetime traced out by
CTCs,^{[11]}
is non-null and lies to the future of Σ_{0}. The fact
that *V* ≠ Ø does not lead to any consistency
constraints on initial data on Σ_{0} since, by
hypothesis, Σ_{0} is not intersected more than once by
any timelike curve, and thus, insofar as the so-called paradoxes of
time travel are concerned with such constraints, the paradoxes do not
arise with respect to Σ_{0}. But by the same token, the
option of traveling back into the past of Σ_{0} is
ruled out by the set up as it has been sketched so far, since
otherwise Σ_{0} would not be a partial Cauchy surface.
This just goes to underscore the point made above that the fans of
science fiction stories of time machines will not find the present
context of discussion broad enough to encompass their vision of how
time machines should operate; they may now stop reading this article
and return to their novels.

As a concrete example of these concepts, consider the (1 +
1)-dimensional Misner spacetime (see
Figure 1)
which exhibits some of the causal features of Taub-NUT spacetime, a
vacuum solution to Einstein's gravitational field equations. It
satisfies all three of the conditions discussed above. It is
temporally orientable, and a time orientation has been singled
out—the shading in the figure indicates the future lobes of the
light cones. To the past of the partial Cauchy surface
Σ_{0} lies the Taub region where the causal structure
of spacetime is as bland as can be desired. But to the future of
Σ_{0} the light cones begin to “tip over,”
and eventually the tipping results in CTCs in the NUT region.

The issue that must be faced now is what further conditions must be
imposed in order that the appearance of CTCs to the future of
Σ_{0} can be attributed to the operation of a time
machine. Not surprisingly, the answer depends not just on the
structure of the spacetime at issue but also on the physical laws
that govern the evolution of the spacetime structure. If one adopts
the attitude that the label “time machine” is to be
reserved for devices that operate within a finite spatial range for a
finite stretch of time, then one will want to impose requirements to
assure that what happens in a compact region of spacetime lying on or
to the future of Σ_{0} is responsible for the CTCs. Or
one could be more liberal and allow the would-be time machine to be
spread over an infinite space. We will adopt the more liberal stance
since it avoids various complications while still sufficing to elicit
key points. Again, one could reserve the label “time
machine” for devices that manipulate concentrations of
mass-energy in some specified ways. For example, based on Gödel
spacetime—where matter is everywhere rotating and a CTC passes
through every spacetime point—one might conjecture that setting
into sufficiently rapid rotation a finite mass concentration of
appropriate shape will eventuate in CTCs. But with the goal in mind
of proving negative general results, it is better to proceed in a
more abstract fashion. Think of the conditions on the partial Cauchy
surface Σ_{0} as encoding the instructions for the
operation of the time machine. The details of the operation of the
device—whether it operates in a finite region of spacetime,
whether it operates by setting matter into rotation, etc.—can
be left to the side. What must be addressed, however, is whether the
processes that evolve from the state on Σ_{0} can be
deemed to be responsible for the subsequent appearance of CTCs.

## 3. When can a would-be time machine be held responsible for the emergence of CTCs?

The most obvious move is to construe “responsible for” in
the sense of causal determinism. But in the present setting this move
quickly runs into a dead end. For if CTCs exist to the future of
Σ_{0} they are not causally determined by the state on
Σ_{0} since the time travel region *V*, if it is
non-null, lies outside the *future domain of dependence*
*D*^{+}(Σ_{0}) of Σ_{0},
the portion of spacetime where the field equations of relativistic
physics uniquely determine the state of things from the state on
Σ_{0}.^{[12]}
The point is illustrated by the toy model of
Figure 1.
The surface labeled *H*^{+}(Σ_{0}) is
called the *future Cauchy horizon* of Σ_{0}. It
is the future boundary of
*D*^{+}(Σ_{0}),^{[13]}
and it separates the portion of spacetime where conditions are
causally determined by the state on Σ_{0} from the
portion where conditions are not so determined. And, as advertised,
the CTCs in the model of
Figure 1
lie beyond *H*^{+}(Σ_{0}).

Thus, if the operation of a Thornian time machine is to be a live
possibility, some condition weaker than causal determinism must be
used to capture the sense in which the state on Σ_{0}
can be deemed to be responsible for the subsequent development of
CTCs. Given the failure of causal determinism, it seems the next best
thing to demand that the region *V* is “adjacent”
to the future domain of dependence
*D*^{+}(Σ_{0}). Here is an initial stab
at such an adjacency condition. Consider causal curves which have a
future endpoint in the time travel region *V* and no past
endpoint. Such a curve may never leave *V*; but if it does,
require that it intersects Σ_{0}. But this requirement
is too strong because it rules out Thornian time machines altogether.
For a curve of the type in question to reach Σ_{0} it
must intersect *H*^{+}(Σ_{0}), but once
it reaches *H*^{+}(Σ_{0}) it can be
continued endlessly into the past without meeting Σ_{0}
because the generators of *H*^{+}(Σ_{0})
are past endless null geodesics that never meet
Σ_{0}.^{[14]}
This difficulty can be overcome by weakening the requirement at issue
by rephrasing it in terms of timelike curves rather than causal
curves. Now the set of candidate time machine spacetimes satisfying
the weakened requirement is non-empty—as illustrated, once
again, by the spacetime of
Figure 1.
But the weakened requirement is too weak, as illustrated by the (1 +
1)-dimensional version of Deutsch-Politzer
spacetime^{[15]}
(see
Figure 2),
which is constructed from two-dimensional Minkowski spacetime by
deleting the points
*p*_{1}–*p*_{4} and then gluing
together the strips as shown. Every past endless timelike curve that
emerges from the time travel region *V* of Deutsch-Politzer
spacetime does meet Σ_{0}. But this spacetime is not a
plausible candidate for a time machine spacetime. Up to and including
the time Σ_{0} (which can be placed as close to
*V* as desired) this spacetime is identical with empty
Minkowski spacetime. If the state of the corresponding portion of
Minkowski spacetime is not responsible for the development of
CTCs—and it certainly is not since there are no CTCs in
Minkowski spacetime—how can the state on the portion of
Deutsch-Politzer spacetime up to and including the time
Σ_{0} be held responsible for the CTCs that appear in
the future?

The deletion of the points
*p*_{1}–*p*_{4} means that the
Deutsch-Politzer spacetime is singular in the sense that it is
*geodesically
incomplete*.^{[16]}
It would be too drastic to require of a time-machine hosting
spacetime that it be geodesically complete. And in any case the
offending feature of Deutsch-Politzer can be gotten rid of by the
following trick. Multiplying the flat Lorentzian metric
η_{ab} of Deutsch-Politzer spacetime by a scalar
function *j*(*x*, *t*) > produces a new
metric η′_{ab} := *j
η _{ab}* which is conformal to the original metric
and, thus, has exactly the same causal features as the original
metric. But if the conformal factor

*j*is chosen to “blow up” as the missing points

*p*

_{1}–

*p*

_{4}are approached, the resulting spacetime is geodesically complete—intuitively, the singularities have been pushed off to infinity.

A more subtle way to exclude Deutsch-Politzer spacetime focuses on
the generators of *H*^{+}(Σ_{0}). The
stipulations laid down so far for Thornian time machines imply that
the generators of *H*^{+}(Σ_{0}) cannot
intersect Σ_{0}. But in addition it can be required
that these generators do not “emerge from a singularity”
and do not “come from infinity,” and this would suffice
to rule out Deutsch-Politzer spacetime and its conformal cousins as
legitimate candidates for time machine spacetimes. More precisely, we
can impose what Stephen Hawking (1992a,b) calls the requirement that
*H*^{+}(Σ_{0}) be *compactly
generated*; namely, the past endless null geodesics that generate
*H*^{+}(Σ_{0}) must, if extended far
enough into past, fall into and remain in a compact subset of
spacetime. Obviously the spacetime of
Figure 1
fulfills Hawking's requirement—since in this case
*H*^{+}(Σ_{0}) is itself
compact—but just as obviously the spacetime of
Figure 2
(conformally doctored or not) does not.

Imposing the requirement of a compactly generated future Cauchy
horizon has not only the negative virtue of excluding some unsuited
candidate time machine spacetimes but a positive virtue as well. It
is easily proved that if *H*^{+}(Σ_{0})
is compactly generated then the condition of *strong
causality* is violated on
*H*^{+}(Σ_{0}), which means,
intuitively, there are almost closed causal curves near
*H*^{+}(Σ_{0}).^{[17]}
This violation can be taken as an indication that the seeds of CTCs
have been planted on Σ_{0} and that by the time
*H*^{+}(Σ_{0}) is reached they are ready
to bloom.

However, we still have no guarantee that if CTCs do bloom to the
future of Σ_{0}, then the state on Σ_{0}
is responsible for the blooming. Of course, we have already learned
that we cannot have the iron clad guarantee of causal determinism
that the state on Σ_{0} is responsible for the actual
blooming in all of its particularity. But we might hope for a
guarantee that the state on Σ_{0} is responsible for
the blooming of *some* CTCs—the actual ones or others.
The difference takes a bit of explaining. The failure of causal
determinism is aptly pictured by the image of a future
“branching” of world histories, with the different
branches representing different alternative possible futures of (the
domain of dependence of) Σ_{0} that are compatible with
the actual past and the laws of physics. And so it is in the present
setting: if *H*^{+}(Σ_{0}) ≠
Ø, then there will generally be different ways to extend
*D*^{+}(Σ_{0}), all compatible with the
laws of general relativistic physics. But if CTCs are present in all
of these extensions, even through the details of the CTCs may vary
from one extension to another, then the state on Σ_{0}
can rightly be deemed to be responsible for the fact that
subsequently CTCs did develop.

A theorem due to Krasnikov (2002, 2003) might seem to demonstrate
that no relativistic spacetime can count as embodying a Thornian time
machine so understood. Following Krasnikov, call a condition
*C* on a spacetime
(M, *g _{ab}*)

*local*just in case

*C*holds in (M,

*g*) iff it holds in any (

_{ab}*U*,

*g*|

_{ab}*) that is isometric to an open neighborhood of (M,*

_{U}*g*). Examples of local conditions one might want to impose on physically reasonable spacetimes are Einstein's gravitational field equations and so-called energy conditions that restrict the form of the stress-energy tensor

_{ab}*T*. An example of the latter that will come into play below is the

_{ab}*weak energy condition*that says that the energy density is non-negative.

^{[18]}Einstein's field equations (sans cosmological constant) require that

*T*is proportional to the Einstein tensor which is a functional of the metric and its derivatives. Call a

_{ab}*C*-spacetime (M′,

*g*′

_{ab}) a

*C*-

*extension*of a

*C*-spacetime (M,

*g*) spacetime if the latter is isometric to an open proper subset of the former; and call (M,

_{ab}*g*)

_{ab}*C*-

*extensible*if it admits a

*C*-extension and

*C*-

*maximal*otherwise. (Of course,

*C*might be the empty condition.) Krasnikov's theorem shows that every

*C*-spacetime (M,

*g*) admits a

_{ab}*C*-maximal extension (M

^{max},

*g*

^{max}

*) such that all CTCs in (M*

_{ab}^{max},

*g*

^{max}

*) are to the chronological past of the image of M in (M*

_{ab}^{max},

*g*

^{max}

*). So start with some candidate spacetime (M,*

_{ab}*g*) for a Thornian time machine, and apply the theorem to (

_{ab}*D*

^{+}(Σ

_{0}),

*g*|

_{ab}_{D+(Σ0)}). Conclude that no matter what local conditions the candidate spacetime is required to satisfy,

*D*

^{+}(Σ

_{0}) has extensions that also satisfies said local conditions but does not contain CTCs to the future of Σ

_{0}. Thus, the candidate spacetime fails to exhibit the crucial feature identified above necessary for underwriting the contention that the conditions on Σ

_{0}are responsible for the development of CTCs. Hence, it appears as if Krasnikov's theorem effectively prohibits time machines. However, John Manchak (2010, Other Internet Resources) has given the would-be time machine operator a reprieve by providing a counterexample to Krasnikov's “theorem.” But the would-be operator cannot breathe easy since the counteraxmple does not locate the flaw in Krasnikov's proof, leaving open the possibility that the “theorem” can be turned into a genuine theorem by making minor modifications. It is important, therefore, that the advocates of time machines explore other means of escaping such theorems. Here is one promising avenue.

The would-be time machine operator need not capitulate in the face of
Krasnikov's theorem. Recall that the main difficulty in specifying
the conditions for the successful operation of Thornian time machines
traces to the fact that the standard form of causal determinism does
not apply to the production of CTCs. But causal determinism can fail
for reasons that have nothing to do with CTCs or other acausal
features of relativistic spacetimes, and it seems only fair to assure
that these modes of failure have been removed before proceeding to
discuss the prospects for time machines. To zero in on the modes of
failure at issue, consider vacuum solutions (*T _{ab}*
≡ 0) to Einstein's field equations. Let
(M,

*g*) and (M′,

_{ab}*g*′

_{ab}) be two such solutions, and let Σ ⊂ M and Σ′ ⊂ M′ be spacelike hypersurfaces of their respective spacetimes. Suppose that there is an isometry Ψ from some neighborhood

*N*(Σ) of Σ onto a neighborhood

*N*′(Σ′) of Σ′. Does it follow, as we would want determinism to guarantee, that Ψ is extendible to an isometry from

*D*

^{+}(Σ) onto

*D*

^{+}(Σ′)? To see why the answer is negative, start with any solution (M,

*g*) of the vacuum Einstein equations, and cut out a closed set of points lying to the future of

_{ab}*N*(Σ) and in

*D*

^{+}(Σ). Denote the surgically altered manifold by M* and the restriction of

*g*to M* by

_{ab}*g**. Then (M*,

_{ab}*g**

_{ab}) is also a solution of the vacuum Einstein equations. But obviously the pair of solutions (M,

*g*) and (M*,

_{ab}*g**

_{ab}) violates the condition that determinism was supposed to guarantee as Ψ is not extendible to an isometry from

*D*

^{+}(Σ) onto

*D*

^{+}(Σ*). It might seem that the requirement, contemplated above, that the spacetimes under consideration be maximal, already rules out spacetimes that have “holes” in them. But while maximality does rule out the surgically mutilated spacetime just constructed, it does not guarantee hole freeness in the sense needed to make sure that determinism does not stumble before it gets to the starting gate. That (M,

*g*) is hole free in the relevant sense requires that if Σ ⊂ M is a spacelike hypersurface, there does not exist a spacetime (M′,

_{ab}*g*′

_{ab}) and an isometric embedding Φ of

*D*

^{+}(Σ) into M′ such that Φ(

*D*

^{+}(Σ)) is a proper subset of

*D*

^{+}(Φ(Σ)). A theorem due to Robert Geroch (1977, 87), who is responsible for this definition, asserts that if Σ ⊂ M and Σ′ ⊂ M′ are spacelike hypersurfaces in hole-free spacetimes (M,

*g*) and (M′,

_{ab}*g*′

_{ab}), respectively, and if there exists an isometry Ψ: M → M′, then Ψ is indeed extendible to an isometry between

*D*

^{+}(Σ) and

*D*

^{+}(Σ′). Thus, hole freeness precludes an important mode of failure of determinism which we wish to exclude in our discussion of time machines. It can be shown that hole freeness entails, but is not entailed by, maximality.

^{[19]}And it is just this gap that gives the would-be time machine operator some hope, for the maximal CTC-free extensions produced by Krasnikov's construction are not always hole-free, as follows from a recent result by Manchak (2009, see also below).

Thus, we propose that one clear sense of what it would mean for a
Thornian time machine to operate in the setting of general relativity
theory is given by the following assertion: the laws of general
relativistic physics allow solutions containing a partial Cauchy
surface Σ_{0} such that no CTCs lie to the past of
Σ_{0} but every extension of
*D*^{+}(Σ_{0}) as a hole-free solution
of the laws contains CTCs. Correspondingly, a proof of the physical
impossibility of time machines would take the form of showing that
this assertion is false for the actual laws of physics, consisting,
presumably, of Einstein's field equations plus energy conditions and,
perhaps, some additional restrictions as well. And a proof of the
emptiness of the associated concept of a Thornian time machine would
take the form of showing that the assertion is false independently of
the details of the laws of physics, as long as they take the form of
local conditions on *T _{ab}* and

*g*.

_{ab}Recently, John Manchak (2009) has been able to prove that the proposed concept of a time machine isn't empty. He shows that Misner spacetime satisfies the conditions for a time machine as laid out above and thereby establishes that there exist general-relativistic spacetimes, i.e., spacetimes that satisfy Einstein's field equations and that permit the operation of time machines. Energy conditions are automatically satisfied since Misner spacetime is a vacuum solution. Thus, it also rules out a sweeping proof of the physical impossibility of time machines. It remains an open question whether physically more realistic spacetimes also permit the operation of time machines and how generic time-machine spacetimes are in particular spacetime theories, such as general relativity.

If time-machine spacetimes turn out to be highly non-generic, the fan of time machines can retreat to a weaker concept of Thornian time machine by taking a page from probabilistic accounts of causation, the idea being that a time machine can be seen to be at work if its operation increases the probability of the appearance of CTCs. Since general relativity theory itself is innocent of probabilities, they have to be introduced by hand, either by inserting them into the models of the theory, i.e., by modifying the theory at the level of the object-language, or by defining measures on sets of models, i.e., by modifying the theory at the level of the meta-language. Since the former would change the character of the theory, only the latter will be considered. The project for making sense of the notion that a time machine as a probabilistic cause of the appearance of CTCs would then take the following form. First define a normalized measure on the set of models having a partial Cauchy surface to the past of which there are no CTCs. Then show that the subset of models that have CTCs to the future of the partial Cauchy surface has non-zero measure. Next, identify a range of conditions on or near the partial Cauchy surface that are naturally construed as settings of a device that is a would-be probabilistic cause of CTCs, and show that the subset of models satisfying these conditions has non-zero measure. Finally, show that conditionalizing on the latter subset increases the measure of the former subset. Assuming that this formal exercise can be successfully carried out, there remains the task of justifying these as measures of objective chance. This task is especially daunting in the cosmological setting since neither of the leading interpretations of objective chance seems applicable. The frequency interpretation is strained since the development of CTCs may be a non-repeated phenomenon; and the propensity interpretation is equally strained since, barring just-so stories about the Creator throwing darts at the Cosmic Dart Board, there is no chance mechanism for producing cosmological models.

We conclude that, even apart from general doubts about a probabilistic account of causation, the resort to a probabilistic conception of time machines is a desperate stretch, at least in the context of classical general relativity theory. In a quantum theory of gravity, a probabilistic conception of time machines may be appropriate if the theory itself provides the transition probabilities between the relevant states. But an evaluation of this prospect must wait until the theory of quantum gravity is available.

## 4. No-go results for (Thornian) time machines in classical general relativity theory

In order to appreciate the physics literature aimed at proving no-go
results for time machines it is helpful to view these efforts as part
of the broader project of proving *chronology protections
theorems*, which in turn is part of a still larger project of
proving *cosmic censorship theorems*. To explain, we start
with cosmic censorship and work backwards.

For sake of simplicity, concentrate on the initial value problem for
vacuum solutions (*T _{ab}* ≡ 0) to Einstein's
field equations. Start with a three-manifold Σ equipped with
quantities which, when Σ is embedded as a spacelike submanifold
of spacetime, become initial data for the vacuum field equations.
Corresponding to the initial data there exists a
unique

^{[20]}maximal development (M,

*g*) for which (the image of the embedded) Σ is a Cauchy surface.

_{ab}^{[21]}This solution, however, may not be maximal simpliciter, i.e., it may be possible to isometrically embed it as a proper part of a larger spacetime, which itself may be a vacuum solution to the field equations; if so Σ will not be a Cauchy surface for the extended spacetime, which fails to be a globally hyperbolic spacetime.

^{[22]}This situation can arise because of a poor choice of initial value hypersurface, as illustrated in Figure 3 by taking Σ to be the indicated spacelike hyperboloid of (1 + 1)-dimensional Minkowski spacetime. But, more interestingly, the situation can arise because the Einstein equations allow various pathologies, collectively referred to as “naked singularities,” to develop from regular initial data. The strong form of Penrose's celebrated

*cosmic censorship conjecture*proposes that, consistent with Einstein's field equations, such pathologies do not arise under physically reasonable conditions or else that the conditions leading to the pathologies are highly non-generic within the space of all solutions to the field equations. A small amount of progress has been made on stating and proving precise versions of this conjecture.

^{[23]}

One way in which strong cosmic censorship can be violated is through
the emergence of acausal features. Returning to the example of Misner
spacetime
(Figure 1),
the spacetime up to *H*^{+}(Σ_{o}) is
the unique maximal development of the vacuum Einstein equations for
which Σ_{o} is a Cauchy surface. But this development
is extendible, and in the extension illustrated in
Figure 1
global hyperbolicity of the development is lost because of the
presence of CTCs. The *chronology protection conjecture* then
can be construed as a subconjecture of the cosmic censorship
conjecture, saying, roughly, that consistent with Einstein field
equations, CTCs do not arise under physically reasonable conditions
or else that the conditions are highly non-generic within the space
of all solutions to the field equations. No-go results for time
machines are then special forms of chronology protection theorems
that deal with cases where the CTCs are manufactured by time
machines. In the other direction, a very general chronology
protection theorem will automatically provide a no-go result for time
machines, however that notion is understood, and a theorem
establishing strong cosmic censorship will automatically impose
chronology protection.

The most widely discussed chronology protection theorem/no-go result
for time machines in the context of classical general relativity
theory is due to Hawking (1992a). Before stating the result, note
first that, independently of the Einstein field equations and energy
conditions, a partial Cauchy surface Σ must be compact if its
future Cauchy horizon *H*^{+}(Σ) is compact (see
Hawking 1992a and Chrusciel and Isenberg 1993). However, it is
geometrically allowed that Σ is non-compact if
*H*^{+}(Σ) is required only to be compactly
generated rather than compact. But what Hawking showed is that this
geometrical possibility is ruled out by imposing Einstein's field
equations and the weak energy condition. Thus, if Σ_{0}
is a partial Cauchy surface representing the situation just before or
just as the would-be Thornian time machine is switched on, and if a
necessary condition for seeing a Thornian time machine at work is
that *H*^{+}(Σ_{0}) is compactly
generated, then consistently with Einstein's field equations and the
weak energy condition, a Thornian time machine cannot operate in a
spatially open universe since Σ_{0} must be compact.

This no-go result does not touch the situation illustrated in
Figure 1.
Taub-NUT spacetime is a vacuum solution to Einstein's field equations
so the weak energy condition is automatically satisfied, and
*H*^{+}(Σ_{0}) is compact and, a
fortiori, compactly generated. Hawking's theorem is not contradicted
since Σ_{0} is compact. By the same token the theorem
does not speak to the possibility of operating a Thornian time
machine in a spatially closed universe. To help fill the gap, Hawking
proved that when Σ_{0} is compact and
*H*^{+}(Σ_{0}) is compactly generated,
the Einstein field equations and the weak energy condition together
guarantee that both the convergence and shear of the null geodesic
generators of *H*^{+}(Σ_{0}) must
vanish, which he interpreted to imply that no observers can cross
over *H*^{+}(Σ_{0}) to enter the
chronology violating region *V*. But rather than showing that
it is physically impossible to operate a Thornian time machine in a
closed universe, this result shows only that, given the correctness
of Hawking's interpretation, the observers who operate the time
machine cannot take advantage of the CTCs it produces.

There are two sources of doubt about the effectiveness of Hawking's
no-go result even for open universes. The first stems from possible
violations of the weak energy condition by stress-energy tensors
arising from classical relativistic matter fields (see Vollick 1997
and Visser and Barcelo
2000).^{[24]}
The second stems from the fact that Hawking's theorem functions as a
chronology protection theorem only by way of serving as a potential
no-go result for Thornian time machines since the crucial condition
that *H*^{+}(Σ_{0}) is compactly
generated is supposedly justified by being a necessary condition for
the operation of such machine. But in retrospect, the motivation for
this condition seems frayed. As argued in the previous section, if
the Einstein field equations and energy conditions entail that all
hole free extensions of *D*^{+}(Σ_{0})
contain CTCs, then it is plausible to see a Thornian time machine at
work, quite regardless ofwhether or not
*H*^{+}(Σ_{0}) is compactly generated or
not. Of course, it remains to establish the existence of cases where
this entailment holds. If it should turn out that there are no such
cases, then the prospects of Thornian time machines are dealt a
severe blow, but the reasons are independent of Hawking's theorem. On
the other hand, if such cases do exist then our conjecture would be
that they exist even when some of the generators of
*H*^{+}(Σ_{0}) come from singularities
or infinity and, thus, *H*^{+}(Σ_{0}) is
not compactly
generated.^{[25]}

## 5. No-go results in quantum gravity

Three degrees of quantum involvement in gravity can be distinguished.
The first degree, referred to as quantum field theory on curved
spacetimes, simply takes off the shelf a spacetime provided by
general relativity theory and then proceeds to study the behavior of
quantum fields on this background spacetime. The Unruh effect, which
predicts the thermalization of a free scalar quantum field near the
horizon of a black hole, lies within this ambit. The second degree of
involvement, referred to as semi-classical quantum gravity, attempts
to calculate the backreaction of the quantum fields on spacetime
metric by computing the expectation value
<Ψ|*T _{ab}*|Ψ> of the stress-energy
tensor in some appropriate quantum state |Ψ> and then
inserting the value into Einstein's field equations in place of

*T*.

_{ab}^{[26]}Hawking's celebrated prediction of black hole radiation belongs to this ambit.

^{[27]}The third degree of involvement attempts to produce a genuine quantum theory of gravity in the sense that the gravitational degrees of freedom are quantized. Currently loop quantum gravity and string theory are the main research programs aimed at this goal.

^{[28]}

The first degree of quantum involvement, if not opening the door to
Thornian time machines, at least seemed to remove some obstacles
since quantum fields are known to lead to violations of the energy
conditions used in the setting of classical general relativity theory
to prove chronology protection theorems and no-go results for time
machines. However, the second degree of quantum involvement seemed,
at least initially, to slam the door shut. The intuitive idea was
this. Start with a general relativistic spacetime where CTCs develop
to the future of *H*^{+}(Σ) (often referred to
as the “chronology horizon”) for some suitable partial
Cauchy surface Σ. Find that the propagation of a quantum field
on this spacetime background is such that
<Ψ|*T _{ab}*|Ψ> “blows up” as

*H*

^{+}(Σ) is approached from the past. Conclude that the backreaction on the spacetime metric creates unbounded curvature, which effectively cuts off the future development that would otherwise eventuate in CTCs. These intuitions were partly vindicated by detailed calculations in several models. But eventually a number of exceptions were found in which the backreaction remains arbitrarily small near

*H*

^{+}(Σ).

^{[29]}This seemed to leave the door ajar for Thornian time machines.

But fortunes were reversed once again by a result of Kay,
Radzikowski, and Wald (1997). The details of their theorem are too
technical to review here, but the structure of the argument is easy
to grasp. The naïve calculation of
<Ψ|*T _{ab}*|Ψ> results in infinities
which have to be subtracted off to produce a renormalized expectation
value
<Ψ|

*T*|Ψ>

_{ab}*with a finite value. The standard renormalization procedure uses a limiting procedure that is mathematically well-defined if, and only if, a certain condition obtains.*

_{R}^{[30]}The KRW theorem shows that this condition is violated for points on

*H*

^{+}(Σ) and, thus, that the expectation value of the stress-energy tensor is not well-defined at the chronology horizon.

While the KRW theorem is undoubtedly of fundamental importance for
semi-classical quantum gravity, it does not serve as an effective
no-go result for Thornian time machines. In the first place, the
theorem assumes, in concert with Hawking's chronology protection
theorem, that *H*^{+}(Σ) is compactly generated,
and we repeat that it is far from clear that this assumption is
necessary for seeing a Thornian time machine in operation. A second,
and more fundamental, reservation applies even if a compactly
generated *H*^{+}(Σ) is accepted as a necessary
condition for time machines. The KRW theorem functions as a no-go
result by providing a *reductio ad absurdum* with a dubious
absurdity: roughly, if you try to operate a Thornian time machine,
you will end up invalidating semi-classical quantum gravity. But
semi-classical quantum gravity was never viewed as anything more than
a stepping stone to a genuine quantum theory of gravity, and its
breakdown is expected to be manifested when Planck-scale physics
comes into play. This worry is underscored by Visser's (1997, 2003)
findings that in chronology violating models trans-Planckian physics
can be expected to come into play before
*H*^{+}(Σ) is reached.

It thus seems that if some quantum mechanism is to serve as the basis
for chronology protection, it must be found in the third degree of
quantum involvement in gravity. Both loop quantum gravity and string
theory have demonstrated the ability to cure some of the curvature
singularities of classical general relativity theory. But as far as
we are aware there are no demonstrations that either of these
approaches to quantum gravity can get rid of the acausal features
exhibited in various solutions to Einstein's field equations. An
alternative approach to formulate a fully-fledged quantum theory of
gravity attempts to capture the Planck-scale structure of spacetime
by constructing it from causal
sets.^{[31]}
Since these sets must be acyclic, i.e., no element in a causal set
can causally precede itself, CTCs are ruled out a priori. Actually, a
theorem due to Malament (1977) suggests that any Planck-scale
approach encoding only the causal structure of a spacetime cannot
permit CTCs either in the smooth classical spacetimes or a
corresponding phenomenon in their quantum
counterparts.^{[32]}

In sum, the existing no-go results that use the first two degrees of quantum involvement are not very convincing, and the third degree of involvement is not mature enough to allow useful pronouncements. There is, however, a rapidly growing literature on the possibility of time travel in lower-dimensional supersymmetric cousins of string theory. For a review of these recent results and a discussion of the fate of a time-traveller's ambition in loop quantum gravity, see Smeenk and Wüthrich (2010).

## 6. Conclusion

Hawking opined that “[i]t seems there is a chronology
protection agency, which prevents the appearance of closed timelike
curves and so makes the universe safe for historians” (1992a,
603). He may be right, but to date there are no convincing arguments
that such an Agency is housed in either classical general relativity
theory or in semi-classical quantum gravity. And it is too early to
tell whether this Agency is housed in loop quantum gravity or string
theory. But even if it should turn out that Hawking is wrong in that
the laws of physics do not support a Chronology Protection Agency, it
could still be the case that the laws support an Anti-Time Machine
Agency. For it could turn out that while the laws do not prevent the
development of CTCs, they also do not make it possible to attribute
the appearance of CTCs to the workings of any would-be time machine.
We argued that a strong presumption in favor of the latter would be
created in classical general relativity theory by the demonstration
that for any model satisfying Einstein's field equations and energy
conditions as well as possessing a partial Cauchy surface
Σ_{0} to the future of which there are CTCs, there are
hole free extensions of *D*^{+}(Σ_{0})
satisfying Einstein's field equations and energy conditions but
containing no CTCs to the future of Σ_{0}. The
strongest such presumption, however, seems to be ruled out by
Manchak's result (2009). There are no doubt alternative approaches to
understanding what it means for a device to be “responsible
for” the development of CTCs. Exploring these alternatives is
one place that philosophers can hope to make a contribution to an
ongoing discussion that, to date, has been carried mainly by the
physics community. Participating in this discussion means that
philosophers have to forsake the activity of logical gymnastics with
the paradoxes of time travel for the more arduous but (we believe)
rewarding activity of digging into the foundations of physics.

Time machines may never see daylight, and perhaps so for principled reasons that stem from basic physical laws. But even if mathematical theorems in the various theories concerned succeed in establishing the impossibility of time machines, understanding why time machines cannot be constructed will shed light on central problems in the foundations of physics. As we have argued in Section 4, for instance, the hunt for time machines in general relativity theory should be interpreted as a core issue in studying the fortunes of Penrose's cosmic censorship conjecture. This conjecture arguably constitutes the most important open problem in general relativity theory. Similarly, as discussed in Section 5, mathematical theorems related to various aspects of time machines offer results relevant for the search of a quantum theory of gravity. In sum, studying the possibilities for operating a time machine turns out to be not a scientifically peripheral or frivolous weekend activity but a useful way of probing the foundations of classical and quantum theories of gravity.

## Bibliography

- Arntzenius, F. and T. Maudlin, 2009, “Time Travel and Modern
Physics,” in E.N. Zalta (ed.),
*The Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy*(Spring 2009 Edition), URL = <http://plato.stanford.edu/archives/spr2009/entries/time-travel-phys/>. - Brightwell, G., H.F. Dowker, R.S. Garcia, J. Henson, and
R.D. Sorkin, 2003, “‘Observables’ in causal set
cosmology,”
*Physical Review*D, 67: 08403. [Preprint available online.] - Callender, C., 2001, “Thermodynamic Asymmetry in
Time,” in E.N. Zalta (ed.),
*The Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy*(Spring 2001 Edition), URL = <http://plato.stanford.edu/archives/win2001/entries/time-thermo/>. - Chrusciel, P.T. and J. Isenberg, 1993, “Compact Cauchy
Horizons and Cauchy Surfaces,” in B.L. Hu and T.A. Jacobson
(eds.),
*Papers in Honor of Dieter Brill: Directions in General Relativity*, Vol. 2, pp. 97-107. Cambridge: Cambridge University Press. - Davies, P., 2002a,
*How to Build a Time Machine*. London: Viking Penguin. - Davies, P., 2002b, “How to Build a Time
Machine,”
*Scientific American*, 287 (3): 50-55. - Deutsch, D., 1991, “Quantum Mechanics Near Closed Timelike
Lines,”
*Physical Review*D, 44: 3197-3217. - Earman, J., 1995a,
*Bangs, Crunches, Whimpers, and Shrieks: Singularities and Acausalities in Relativistic Spacetimes*. New York: Oxford University Press. - Earman, J., 1995b, “Recent Work on Time Travel,” in
S.F. Savitt (ed.),
*Time's Arrow Today: Recent Physical and Philosophical Work on the Direction of Time*, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, pp. 268-310. - Earman, J., 1995c, “Outlawing Time Machines: Chronology
Protection Theorems,”
*Erkenntnis*, 42: 125-139. - Earman, J., 1999, “The Penrose-Hawking Singularity Theorems:
History and Implications,” in H. Goenner, J. Renn, and T. Sauer
(eds.),
*The Expanding Worlds of General Relativity*, Einstein Studies, Vol. 7, Boston: Birkhäuser, pp. 235-267. - Earman, J., C. Smeenk, and C. Wüthrich, 2009, “Do the
Laws of Physics Forbid the Operation of Time
Machines?”
*Synthese*, 169: 91-124. [Preprint available online] - Geroch, R., 1977, “Prediction in General Relativity,”
in J. Earman, C. Glymour, and J. Stachel (eds.),
*Foundations of Spacetime Theories*, Minnesota Studies in the Philosophy of Science, Vol. VIII, Minneapolis, MN: University of Minnesota Press, pp. 81-93.. - Gott, R., 2001,
*Time Travel in Einstein's Universe*. New York: Houghton Mifflin. - Greene, B., 2003,
*The Elegant Universe*. New York: W. W. Norton. - Hawking, S.W., 1992a, “Chronology Protection
Conjecture,”
*Physical Review*D, 46: 603-611. - Hawking, S.W., 1992b, “The Chronology Protection
Conjecture,” in H. Sato and T. Nakamura (eds.),
*Proceedings of the Sixth Marcel Grossmann Meeting on General Relativity*, pp. 3-13. Singapore: World Scientific. - Hawking, S.W., 2001, “Chronology Protection: Making the
World Safe for Historians,” in S.W. Hawking et
al. (eds.),
*The Future of Spacetime*, New York: W.W. Norton, pp. 87-108. - Hawking, S.W. and G.F.R. Ellis, 1973,
*The Large Scale Structure of Space-Time*. Cambridge: Cambridge University Press. - Hawking, S.W. and R. Penrose, 1970, “The Singularities of
Gravitational Collapse and Cosmology,”
*Proceedings of the Royal Society of London*A, 314: 529-548. - Hoefer, C., 2003, “Causal Determinism,” in E.N. Zalta
(ed.),
*The Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy*(Spring 2003 Edition), URL = <http://plato.stanford.edu/archives/spr2003/entries/determinism-causal/>. - Kay, B.S., M.J. Radzikowski, and R.M. Wald, 1997, “Quantum
Field Theory On Spacetimes with Compactly Generated Cauchy
Horizons.”
*Communications in Mathematical Physics*, 183: 533-556. - Keller, S. and M. Nelson, 2001, “Presentists Should Believe
in Time-Travel,”
*Australasian Journal of Philosophy*, 79: 333-345. - Krasnikov, S., 1999, “Time Machines with Non-Compactly
Generated Cauchy Horizons and ‘Handy
Singularities’,” in T. Piran and R. Ruffini
(eds.),
*Proceedings of the Eighth Marcel Grossmann Meeting on General Relativity*, pp. 593-595. Singapore: World Scientific. [Preprint available online.] - Krasnikov, S., 2002, “No Time Machines in Classical General
Relativity,”
*Classical and Quantum Gravity*, 19: 4109-4129. [Preprint available online.] - Krasnikov, S., 2003, “Time Machine (1988-2001),” talk given at 11th UK Conference on the Foundations of Physics, Oxford, England, 9-13, Sept. 2002. [Preprint available online.]
- Malament, D.B., 1977, “The class of continuous timelike
curves determines the topology of spacetime,”
*Journal of Mathematical Physics*, 18: 1399-1404. - Manchak, J.B., 2009, “On the Existence of ‘Time
Machines’ in General Relativity,”
*Philosophy of Science*, 76: 1020-1026. - Monton, B., 2003, “Presentists Can Believe in Closed
Timelike Curves,”
*Analysis*, 63: 199-202. - Morris, M.S. and K.S. Thorne, 1988, “Wormholes in Spacetime
and Their Use for Interstellar Travel: A Tool for Teaching General
Relativity,”
*American Journal of Physics*, 56: 395-412. - Morris, M.S., K.S. Thorne, and U. Yurtsever, 1988,
“Wormholes, Time Machines, and the Weak Energy
Condition,”
*Physical Review Letters*, 61: 1446-1449. - Nahin, P.J., 1999,
*Time Machines: Time Travel in Physics, Metaphysics, and Science Fiction*. New York: AIP Press, Springer. - Norton, J., 2008, “The Hole Argument,” in E.N. Zalta
(ed.),
*The Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy*(Spring 2008 Edition), URL = <http://plato.stanford.edu/archives/spr2008/entries/spacetime-holearg/>. - Ori, A., 1993, “Must Time-Machine Construction Violate the
Weak Energy Condition?”
*Physical Review Letters*, 71: 2517-2520. - Politzer, H.D., 1992, “Simple Quantum Systems in Spacetimes
with Closed Timelike Curves,”
*Physical Review*D, 46: 4470-4476. - Rovelli, C., 2004,
*Quantum Gravity*, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press. - Smeenk, C. and C. Wüthrich, 2010, “Time Travel and Time
Machines”, forthcoming in C. Callender (ed.),
*The Oxford Handbook of Time*, Oxford: Oxford University Press. - Visser, M., 1997, “The Reliability Horizon for
Semi-Classical Quantum Gravity: Metric Fluctuations Are Often More
Important than Back-Reaction,”
*Physics Letters*B, 115: 8-14. - Visser, M., 2003, “The Quantum Physics of Chronology
Protection,” in G.W. Gibbons, E.P.S. Shellard, S.J. Rankin
(eds.),
*The Future of Theoretical Physics and Cosmology: Celebrating Stephen Hawking's 60th Birthday*, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, pp. 161-176. - Visser, M. and C. Barcelo, 2000, “Energy conditions and their cosmological implications,” Plenary talk presented at Cosmo99, Trieste Sept/Oct 1999. [Preprint available online.]
- Vollick, D.N., 1997, “How to Produce Exotic Matter Using
Classical Fields,”
*Physical Review*D, 56: 4720-4723. - Wald, R.M., 1984,
*General Relativity*. Chicago: University of Chicago Press. - Wald, R.M., 1994,
*Quantum Field Theory in Curved Spacetime and Black Hole Thermodynamics*. Chicago: University of Chicago Press. - Wald, R.M., 1998, “Gravitational Collapse and Cosmic
Censorship,” in B.R. Iyer, and B. Bhawal (eds.),
*Black Holes, Gravitational Radiation and the Universe: Essays in Honor of C. V. Vishveshwara*, pp. 69-85. Dordrecht: Kluwer Academic Publishers. [Preprint available online.] - Wells, H.G., 1931,
*The Time Machine*. New York: Random House. - Zwiebach, B., 2004,
*A First Course on String Theory*. Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.

## Academic Tools

How to cite this entry. Preview the PDF version of this entry at the Friends of the SEP Society. Look up this entry topic at the Indiana Philosophy Ontology Project (InPhO). Enhanced bibliography for this entry at PhilPapers, with links to its database.

## Other Internet Resources

- Rovelli, C., 1998, “Loop Quantum Gravity”, in
*Living Reviews in Relativity*.

### Acknowledgments

We thank Carlo Rovelli for discussions and John Norton for comments on an earlier draft. C.W. acknowledges support by the Swiss National Science Foundation (grant PBSK1-102693).