Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy
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First published Mon Jan 8, 2007

The word ‘philosophy’ means ‘love of wisdom.’ What is wisdom? What is this thing that philosophers love? Some of the systematic philosophers of the past have taken on the subject with great seriousness. Unfortunately, the topic of wisdom has not received much treatment in the contemporary philosophical literature. This entry will provide a general overview, and analysis of, some dominant views on the topic of wisdom. It will cover several versions of four general approaches to understanding what is wisdom: (1) wisdom as epistemic humility, (2) wisdom as epistemic accuracy, (3) wisdom as knowledge, and (4) wisdom as knowledge and action.

1. Wisdom as Epistemic Humility

Socrates' view of wisdom, as expressed by Plato in The Apology (20e-23c), is sometimes interpreted as an example of a humility theory of wisdom (see, for example, Ryan 1996). In Plato's Apology, Socrates and his friend Chaerephon, visit the oracle at Delphi. As the story goes, Chaerephon asks the oracle whether anyone is wiser than Socrates. The oracle answers “No, Socrates is the wisest person.” Socrates reports that he is puzzled by this answer since so many other people in the community are well known for their extensive knowledge and wisdom, but Socrates claims that he lacks extensive knowledge and wisdom. Socrates does an investigation to get to the bottom of this puzzle. He interrogates a series of politicians, poets, and craftsmen. As one would expect, the Socratic grilling reveals that those who claim to know either did not really know any of the things they claimed to know, or else they knew far less than they proclaimed to know. The most knowledgeable of the bunch, the craftsmen, knew quite a bit about their craft, but they claimed to know things far beyond the scope of their expertise. Socrates, so we are told, neither suffers the vice of claiming to know when he does not know nor of claiming to have wisdom when he does not have wisdom. In this revelation, we are supposed to have a resolution to the wisdom puzzle in The Apology.

Although the story may seem to deliver a clear theory of what it is to be wise, it is difficult to capture a textually accurate and plausible theory here. One interpretation is that Socrates is wise because he, unlike the others, believes he is not wise. The poets, politicians, and craftsmen arrogantly and falsely believe they are wise. This theory, which will be labeled Humility Theory 1 (H1), is simply (see, for example, Lehrer and Smith 1996, p. 3):

Humility Theory 1 (H1):
S is wise iff S believes s/he is not wise.

This is a tempting and popular interpretation because Socrates certainly thinks he has shown, through his questioning, that the poets, politicians, and craftsmen lacked wisdom. Socrates also states that the poets, politicians, and craftsmen all boasted of their own wisdom. Moreover, Socrates claims that he is not wise, and yet, if we trust the oracle, Socrates is actually wise.

Upon careful inspection, (H1) is not a reasonable interpretation of Socrates' view. For one thing, it seems that although Socrates does not boast of his own wisdom, he does believe the oracle. If he was convinced that he was not wise, he would have rejected the oracle and gone about his business. If he did not believe the oracle, he would not find any puzzle to unravel. Clearly, he believes, on some level, that he is wise. The mystery is: what is wisdom if he has it and the others lack it? Socrates nowhere suggests that he has become unwise after believing the oracle. Thus, (H1) is not an acceptable interpretation of Socrates' own view.

Moreover, (H1) is false. Many people are clear counterexamples to (H1). Many people who believe they are not wise are correct in their self-assessment. The belief that one is not wise is not a sufficient condition for wisdom. Furthermore, it seems that the belief that one is not wise is not necessary for wisdom. It seems plausible to think that a wise person could be wise enough to realize that she is wise. If one thinks Socrates was a wise person, and if one accepts that Socrates did, in fact, accept that he was wise, then Socrates is a counterexample to (H1). The belief that one is wise could be a perfectly well justified belief for a wise person. Having the belief that one is wise does not, in itself, eliminate the possibility that the person is wise. Moreover, we should hope that a wise person would have epistemic self-confidence, appreciate that she is wise, and share what she knows with the rest of us who could benefit from her wisdom. Thus, the belief that one is not wise is not necessary for wisdom.

(H1) focused on believing one is not wise. Another version of the humility theory is worth considering. When Socrates demonstrates that a person is not wise, he does so by showing that the person lacks some knowledge that he or she claims to possess. Thus, one might think that Socrates' view could be better captured by focusing on the idea that wise people believe they lack knowledge (rather than lacking wisdom). That is, one might consider the following view:

Humility Theory 2 (H2):
S is wise iff S believes S does not know anything.

Unfortunately, this interpretation is not any better than (HP1). It falls prey to problems similar to those that refuted (H1) both as an interpretation of Socrates, and as an acceptable account of wisdom. Moreover, Socrates admits that the craftsmen do have some knowledge. Socrates may have considered them to be wise if they had restricted their confidence and claims to knowledge to what they actually did know about their craft. Their problem was that they professed to have knowledge beyond their area of expertise. The problem for them was not that they claimed to have knowledge. Humility views of wisdom are not promising. There are more promising theories to consider.

2. Wisdom as Epistemic Accuracy

Socrates can be interpreted in another way. The poets, politicians, and craftsmen all believe they that have knowledge of things that they do not know. Socrates, one might argue, believes he has knowledge when, and only when, he really does have knowledge. Perhaps wise people restrict their confidence, or their belief that they possess knowledge, to propositions for which they have knowledge or, at least, to propositions for which they have excellent justification. Perhaps Socrates is better interpreted as having held an Epistemic Accuracy Theory such as:

Epistemic Accuracy Theory 1 (EA1):
S is wise iff for all p, (S believes S knows p iff S knows p.)

According to (EA1), a wise person is accurate about what she knows and what she does not know. If she really knows p, she believes she knows p. And, if she believes she knows p, then she really does know p. (EA1) is consistent with the idea that Socrates accepts that he is wise and with the idea that Socrates does have some knowledge. (EA1) is a plausible interpretation of the view Socrates endorses, but it is not a plausible answer to our search for an understanding of wisdom. Wise people can make mistakes about what they know. Socrates, Maimonides, King Solomon, Einstein, Goethe, Gandhi, Ani DiFranco, and even Yoda have held justified, false beliefs about what they did and did not know. It is easy to imagine a wise person being justified in believing she knows p and also easy to imagine that p could be shown to be false 500 or more years after her death. If (EA1) is true, then just because S believes she had knowledge when she does not, she is not wise. That seems wrong. It is hard to imagine that anyone at all is, or ever has been, wise if (EA1) is correct.

We could revise the Epistemic Accuracy Theory to get around this problem. We might only require that a wise person's belief is highly justified when she believes she has knowledge. That excuses people with bad epistemic luck.

Epistemic Accuracy 2 (EA2):
S is wise iff for all p, (S believes S knows p iff S's belief in p is highly justified.)

(EA2) gets around the problem with (EA1). The Socratic Method challenges one to produce reasons for one's view. When Socrates' interlocutor is left dumbfounded, or reduced to absurdity, Socrates rests his case. One might argue that through his questioning, Socrates reveals not merely that his opponents lack knowledge because their beliefs are false, but he also demonstrates that his opponents are not even justified in holding the views they professed to know. Since the craftsmen, poets, and politicians questioned by Socrates all fail his interrogation, they were shown, one might argue, to have claimed to have knowledge when their beliefs were not even justified.

Many philosophers would hesitate to endorse this interpretation of what is going on in The Apology. They would argue that a failure to answer Socrates' grilling session does not show that a person is not justified in believing a proposition. Many philosophers would argue that having very good evidence or forming a belief via a reliable method would be sufficient for justification (see the entries on evidence and reliabilism) and internalism vs externalism. Proving, or demonstrating to an interrogator, that one is justified is another matter, and not necessary for simply being justified. Socrates, some might argue, shows only that the craftsmen, poets, and politicians cannot defend themselves from his questions. He does not show, one might argue, that the poets, politicians, and craftsmen had unjustified beliefs. Since we gain very little insight into how the questioning proceeded in this dialogue, it would be unfair to dismiss this interpretation on these grounds. Perhaps Socrates did show, through his intense questioning, that the craftsmen, poets, and politicians formed and held their beliefs without adequate evidence or formed and held them through unreliable belief forming processes. Socrates only reports that they did not know all that they professed to know. Since we do not get to witness the actual questioning as we do in Plato's other dialogues, we should not reject (EA2) as an interpretation of Socrates' view of wisdom in The Apology.

Regardless of whether (EA2) is Socrates' view, there are problems for (EA2) as an account of what it means to be wise. Even if (EA2) is exactly what Socrates meant, some philosophers would argue that one could be justified in believing a proposition, but not realize that she is justified. If that is a possible situation for a wise person to be in, then she might be justified, but fail to believe she has knowledge. Could a wise person be in such a situation, or is it necessary that a wise person would always recognize the epistemic value of what he or she believes?[1] If this situation is impossible, then this criticism could be avoided. There is no need to resolve this issue here because (EA1) and (EA2) fall prey to another, less controversial, type of problem.

(EA1) and (EA2) suffer from a similar, and very serious, problem. Imagine a person who has very little knowledge. Suppose further, that the few things she does know are of no importance. She could be the sort of person that nobody would ever go to for information or advice, because she does not know anything interesting or important. Such a person could be very cautious and believe that she knows only what she actually knows. Although she would have accurate beliefs about what she does and does not know, she would not be wise. This shows that (EA1) is flawed. As for (EA2), imagine that she believes she knows only what she is actually justified in believing. She is still not wise. It should be noted, however, that although accuracy theories do not provide an adequate account of wisdom, they may reveal an important insight. Perhaps a necessary condition for being wise is that wise people think they have knowledge only when their beliefs are highly justified. Or, even more simply, perhaps wise people have very few unjustified beliefs.

3. Wisdom as Knowledge

An alterative approach to wisdom focuses on the more positive idea that wise people are very knowledgeable people. There are many views in the historical and contemporary philosophical literature on wisdom that have knowledge, as opposed to humility or accuracy, as at least a necessary condition of wisdom. Aristotle (Nichomachean Ethics VI, ch. 7), Descartes (Principles of Philosophy), Richard Garrett (1996), John Kekes (1983), Lehrer & Smith (1996), Nicholas Maxwell (1984), Robert Nozick (1989), Plato (The Republic), and Sharon Ryan (1996, 1999), for example, all have theories of wisdom that require a wise person to have knowledge of some sort. All of these views very clearly distinguish knowledge from mere expertise on some subject. Moreover, all of these views maintain that wise people know “what is important.” The views differ, for the most part, over what it is that the wise person must know and whether there is any action that is required for wisdom.

Aristotle distinguished between two different kinds of wisdom, theoretical wisdom and practical wisdom. Theoretical, or philosophical wisdom, is, according to Aristotle, “scientific knowledge, combined with intuitive reason, of the things that are highest by nature (Nicomachean Ethics, VI, 1141b). For Aristotle, theoretical wisdom involves knowledge of necessary, scientific, first principles and propositions that can be logically deduced from them. Aristotle's idea that scientific knowledge is knowledge of necessary truths and their logical consequences is not a widely accepted view. Thus, for the purposes of this discussion, I will consider a view in the spirit of Aristotle's view on theoretical wisdom, but without the controversy about the necessary or contingent nature of scientific knowledge. Moreover, it will combine scientific knowledge with other kinds of factual knowledge, including knowledge about history, philosophy, music, literature, mathematics, etc. The following view captures a basic feature of Aristotle's theoretical wisdom:

Wisdom as Extensive Factual Knowledge (WFK):
S is wise iff S has extensive factual knowledge about science, history, philosophy, literature, music, etc.

According to (WFK), a wise person is a person who knows a lot about the Universe and our place in it, for example. She would know about Mozart's life and works, for example. She would know about our rich cultural history, for example. She would know Plato's theory of justice, for example. There are many positive things to say about (WFK). (WFK) nicely distinguishes between mere expertise and knowledge of the mundane from the important, broad, and general kind of knowledge had by wise people.

The main problem for (WFK) is that some of the most knowledgeable people are not wise. Although they have an abundance of very important factual knowledge, they lack the kind of practical know-how that is a mark of a wise person. Wise people know how to get on in the world in all kinds of situations and with all kinds of people. Extensive factual knowledge is not enough to give us what a wise person knows. As Robert Nozick points out, “Wisdom is not just knowing fundamental truths, if these are unconnected with the guidance of life or with a perspective on its meaning (1989, 269). There is more to wisdom than intelligence and knowledge of science and philosophy or any other subject matter. Aristotle is well aware of the limitations of what he calls theoretical wisdom. However, rather than making improvements to something like (WFK), Aristotle distinguishes it as one kind of wisdom. Other philosophers would be willing to abandon (WFK), as is, claim that it provides insufficient conditions for wisdom, and add on what is missing.

Aristotle has a concept of practical wisdom that makes up for what is missing in theoretical wisdom. In Book VI of the Nicomachean Ethics, he claims, “This is why we say Anaxagoras, Thales, and men like them have philosophic but not practical wisdom, when we see them ignorant of what is to their own advantage, and why we say that they know things that are remarkable, admirable, difficult, and divine, but useless; viz. because it is not human goods they seek” (1141a). Knowledge of contingent facts that are useful to living well is required for Aristotle's practical wisdom. According to Aristotle, “Now it is thought to be the mark of a man of practical wisdom to be able to deliberate well about what is good and expedient for himself, not in some particular respect, e.g. about what sorts of thing conduce to health or to strength, but about what sorts of thing conduce to the good life in general (Nichomachean Ethics, VI, 1140a–1140b). Thus, for Aristotle, practical wisdom requires knowing, in general, how to live well. Many philosophers agree with Aristotle on this point. However, many would not be satisfied with the conclusion that theoretical wisdom is one kind of wisdom and practical wisdom another. Wisdom, in general, requires practical wisdom. What Aristotle calls theoretical wisdom, many would contend, is not wisdom at all. Aristotle's theoretical wisdom is merely extensive knowledge. Robert Nozick holds a view very similar to Aristotle's theory of practical wisdom, but Nozick is trying to capture the essence of wisdom, period. He is not trying to define one, alternative, kind of wisdom. Nozick claims, “Wisdom is what you need to understand in order to live well and cope with the central problems and avoid the dangers in the predicaments human beings find themselves in” (1989, 267). And, John Kekes maintains that, “What a wise man knows, therefore, is how to construct a pattern that, given the human situation, is likely to lead to a good life (1983, 280). This practical view of wisdom could be expressed as follows.

Wisdom as Knowing How To Live Well (KLW):
S is wise iff S knows how to live well.

This view captures Aristotle's basic idea of practical wisdom. It also captures an important aspect of views defended by Nozick, Plato, Garrett, Kekes, and Ryan. Although giving an account of what it means to know how to live well may prove as difficult a topic as providing an account of wisdom, Nozick provides a very illuminating start.

Wisdom is not just one type of knowledge, but diverse. What a wise person needs to know and understand constitutes a varied list: the most important goals and values of life – the ultimate goal, if there is one; what means will reach these goals without too great a cost; what kinds of dangers threaten the achieving of these goals; how to recognize and avoid or minimize these dangers; what different types of human beings are like in their actions and motives (as this presents dangers or opportunities); what is not possible or feasible to achieve (or avoid); how to tell what is appropriate when; knowing when certain goals are sufficiently achieved; what limitations are unavoidable and how to accept them; how to improve oneself and one's relationships with others or society; knowing what the true and unapparent value of various things is; when to take a long-term view; knowing the variety and obduracy of facts, institutions, and human nature; understanding what one's real motives are; how to cope and deal with the major tragedies and dilemmas of life, and with the major good things too. (1989, 269)

With Nozick's explanation of what one must know in order to live well, we have an interesting and quite attractive, albeit somewhat rough, theory of wisdom. Many philosophers, including Aristotle, however, would reject (KLW) as the full story on wisdom. Aristotle would obviously reject (KLW) as the full story because he believes theoretical wisdom is another kind of wisdom, and he appears unwilling to accept that there is a conception of one, general, kind of wisdom. Moreover, Aristotle asserts, “Therefore it is evident that it is impossible to be practically wise without being good (Nichomachean Ethics, VI 1144a). Kekes claims, “The possession of wisdom shows itself in reliable, sound, reasonable, in a word, good judgment. In good judgment, a person brings his knowledge to bear on his actions. To understand wisdom, we have to understand its connection with knowledge, action, and judgment (1983, 277). Kekes adds, “Wisdom ought also to show in the man who has it.” (1983, 281). Many philosophers, therefore, think that wisdom is not restricted to knowledge. These philosophers believe that being wise also includes action. A person could satisfy the conditions of any of the principles we have considered thus far and nevertheless behave in a wildly reckless manner. Wildly reckless people are, even if very knowledgeable, not wise.

4. Wisdom as Knowledge and Action

Some philosophers who are attracted to the idea that knowing how to live well is a necessary condition for wisdom might want to simply tack on a success condition to (KLW) to get around cases in which a person knows all about living well, yet fails to put this knowledge into practice.

Wisdom as Knowing How To, and Succeeding at, Living Well (KLS):
S is wise iff (i) S knows how to live well, and (ii) S is successful at living well.

The idea of the success condition is that one puts one's knowledge into practice. An important matter of controversy in this view is whether being successful at living well requires being morally good, or virtuous. That issue will be noted but ignored here. A view along the lines of (KLS) would be embraced by Aristotle (for practical wisdom), Kekes, and Nozick. (KLS) would not be universally embraced, even as a rough account of wisdom (see Ryan 1999, for further criticisms). A criticism of (KLS) is that one might think that all the factual knowledge required by (WFK) is missing from this theory. One might argue that (WFK), the view that a wise person has extensive factual knowledge, was rejected only because it did not provide sufficient conditions for wisdom. Many philosophers would claim that (WFK) does provide a necessary condition for wisdom. A wise person, such a critic would argue, needs know how to live well (as described by Nozick), but she also needs to have some deep and far-reaching theoretical, or factual knowledge, as well. In the preface of his Principles of Philosophy, Descartes insisted upon factual knowledge as an important component of wisdom. Descartes wrote, “It is really only God alone who has Perfect Wisdom, that is to say, who has a complete knowledge of the truth of all things; but it may be said that men have more wisdom or less according as they have more or less knowledge of the most important truths” (Principles, 204). Of course, among those important truths, one might claim, are truths about living well.

Moreover, one might complain that the insight left standing from Epistemic Accuracy theories is also missing from (KLS). One might think that a wise person not only knows a lot and succeeds at living well, she also confines her claims to knowledge (or belief that she has knowledge) to those propositions that she is justified in believing. Or, perhaps more simply and more reasonably, she has very few unjustified beliefs.


A brief survey of four general approaches to understanding the nature of wisdom has left us with a promising, general, answer to our question. The basic theory we are left with is:

S is wise iff
  1. S has extensive factual and theoretical knowledge.
  2. S knows how to live well.
  3. S is successful at living well.
  4. S has very few unjustified beliefs.

Clearly, every one of these conditions needs some careful explanation. However, this theory has all the benefits of the other theories and it lacks all the problems of the alternatives. It is a step in the right direction, and a promising start for further discussion on this thorny question.


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