Religion and Morality

First published Wed Sep 27, 2006; substantive revision Thu Aug 8, 2019

From the beginning of the Abrahamic faiths and of Greek philosophy, religion and morality have been closely intertwined. This is true whether we go back within Greek philosophy or within Christianity and Judaism and Islam. The present entry will not try to step beyond these confines, since there are other entries on Eastern thought (see, for example, the entries on Ethics in Indian and Tibetan Buddhism and Chinese Ethics). The entry proceeds chronologically, giving greatest length to the contemporary period. It cannot, within the present compass, aspire to be comprehensive. But it will be able to describe the main options as they have occurred historically. The purpose of proceeding historically is to substantiate the claim that morality and religion have been inseparable until very recently, and that our moral vocabulary is still deeply infused with this history. Since there are historically so many different ways to see the relation, a purely schematic or typological account is not likely to succeed as well. The entry will not try to enter deeply into the ethical theories of the individual philosophers mentioned, since this encyclopedia already contains individual entries about them; it will focus on what they say about the relation between morality and religion.

The term ‘morality’ as used in this entry will not be distinguished from ‘ethics.’ Philosophers have drawn various contrasts between the two at various times (Kant for example, and Hegel, and more recently R.M. Hare and Bernard Williams). But etymologically, the term ‘moral’ comes from the Latin mos, which means custom or habit, and it is a translation of the Greek ethos, which means roughly the same thing, and is the origin of the term ‘ethics’. In contemporary non-technical use, the two terms are more or less interchangeable, though ‘ethics’ has slightly more flavor of theory, and has been associated with the prescribed practice of various professions (e.g., medical ethics, etc.). In any case, this entry will assume that morality is a set of customs and habits that shape how we think about how we should live or about what is a good human life. The term ‘religion’ is much disputed. Again, we can learn from the etymology. The origin of the word is probably the Latin religare, to bind back. Not all uses of the term require reference to a divinity or divinities. But this entry will use the term so that there is such a reference, and a religion is a system of belief and practice that accepting a ‘binding’ relation to such a being or beings. This does not, however, give us a single essence of religion, since the conceptions of divinity are so various, and human relations with divinity are conceived so variously that no such essence is apparent even within Western thought. The ancient Greeks, for example, had many intermediate categories between full gods or goddesses and human beings. There were spirits (in Greek daimones) and spiritual beings like Socrates's mysterious voice (daimonion) (Apology, 31d1–4, 40a2–c3). There were heroes who were offspring of one divine and one human parent. There were humans who were deified, like the kings of Sparta. This is just within the culture of ancient Greece. If we included Eastern religions in the scope of the discussion, the hope for finding a single essence of religion would recede further. Probably it is best to understand ‘religion’ as a term for a group of belief/practice amalgams with a family resemblance to each other, but no set of necessary and sufficient conditions tying them together (see Wittgenstein, Philosophical Investigations, 65–7).

1. Ancient Greek Philosophy

We can start with the Greeks, and this means starting with Homer, a body of texts transmitted first orally and then written down in the seventh century BCE. So what does the relation between morality and religion look like in Homer? The first thing to say is that the gods and goddesses of the Homeric poems behave remarkably like the noble humans described in the same poems, even though the humans are mortal and the gods and goddesses immortal. Both groups are motivated by the desire for honor and glory, and are accordingly jealous when they receive less than they think they should while others receive more, and work ceaselessly to rectify this. The two groups are not however symmetrical, because the noble humans have the same kind of client relation to the divinities as subordinate humans do to them. There is a complex pattern that we might call ‘an honor-loop’ (see Mikalson, Honor Thy Gods). The divinities have their functions (in Greek, the word is the same as ‘honors’), such as Poseidon's oversight of the sea, and humans seek their favor with ‘honor’, which we might here translate as ‘worship’. This includes, for example, sanctuaries devoted to them, dedications, hymns, dances, libations, rituals, prayers, festivals and sacrifices. In all of these the gods take pleasure, and in return they give ‘honor’ to mortals in the form of help or assistance, especially in the areas of their own expertise. There is a clear analogy with purely human client-relations, which are validated in the Homeric narrative, since the poems were probably originally sung at the courts of the princes who claimed descent from the heroes whose exploits make up the story. The gods and goddesses are not, however, completely at liberty. They too are accountable to fate or justice, as in the scene in the Iliad, where Zeus wants to save Hector, but he cannot because ‘his doom has long been sealed’ (Iliad, 22: 179).

It is sometimes said that the Presocratic philosophers come out of Homer by rejecting religion in favor of science. There is a grain of truth in this, for when Thales (who flourished around 580) is reported as saying ‘Water is the origin (or principle) of all things,’ this is different from saying, for example, that Tethys is mother of all the rivers, because it deletes the character of narrative or story (Aristotle's Metaphysics, 983b20–8). When Anaximenes (around 545) talks of air as the primary element differing in respect of thinness and thickness, or Heraclitus explains all change as a pattern in the turnings of fire igniting in measures and going out in measures, they are not giving stories with plot-lines involving quasi-human intentions and frustrations (DK 13, A 5, DK 22, B 30). But it is wrong to say that they have left religion behind. Heraclitus puts this enigmatically by saying that the one and only wisdom does and does not consent to be called Zeus (DK 22, B 14). He is affirming the divinity of this wisdom, but denying the anthropomorphic character of much Greek religion. ‘To god all things are beautiful and good and just but humans suppose some things to be just and others unjust’ (DK 22, B 102). He ties this divine wisdom to the laws of a city, ‘for all human laws are nourished by the one divine law’ (DK 22, B 114), though he does not have confidence that ‘the many’ are capable of making law. The sophists, to whom Socrates responded, rejected this tie between human law and divine law and this was in part because of their expertise in rhetoric, by which they taught their students how to manipulate the deliberations of popular assemblies, and so change the laws to their own advantage. The most famous case is Protagoras (c. 490–21), who stated in the first sentence of his book Truth that ‘A human being is the measure of all things, of what is that it is, and of what is not that it is not’ (Plato's Theaetetus, 152a). Protagoras is not correctly seen here as skeptical about morality or religion. It is true that he claimed he was not in a position to know either the manner in which the gods are or are not (another translation is ‘that they are or are not’) or what they are like in appearance (DK 80, B 4). But as Plato (c. 430–347) presents him, he told the story that all humans have been given by the gods the gifts of shame and justice, so as to make possible the founding of cities; this is why each human is the measure. Even Thrasymachus, in the first book of Plato's Republic, thinks of justice as the same thing amongst gods and humans (Republic, 388c). His view of what this justice is, namely the interest of the stronger, is disputed by Plato. But the claim that justice operates at both the divine and human levels is common ground.

Socrates (c. 470–399) in one of the early dialogues debates the nature of the holy with Euthyphro, who is a religious professional. Euthyphro is taking his own father to court for murder, and though ordinary Greek morality would condemn such an action as impiety, Euthyphro defends it on the basis that the gods behave in the same sort of way, according to the traditional stories. Socrates makes it clear that he does not believe these stories, because they attribute immorality to the gods. This does not mean, however, that he does not believe in the gods. He was observant in his religious practices, and he objects to the charge of not believing in the city's gods that was one of the bases of the prosecution at his own trial. He points to the spirit who gives him commands about what not to do (Apology, 31d), and we learn later that he found it significant that this voice never told him to stop conducting his trial in the way that in fact led to his death (Ibid., 40a-c). Socrates interpreted this as an invitation from the gods to die, thus refuting the charge that, by conducting his trial in the way he did, he was guilty of theft – i.e., depriving the gods of his life that properly belonged to them (Phaedo, 62b). His life in particular was a service to god, he thought, because his testing of the wisdom of others was carrying out Apollo's charge given by the oracle at Delphi, implicit in the startling pronouncement that he was the wisest man in Greece (Apology, 21a-d).

Socrates's problem with the traditional stories about the gods gives rise to what is sometimes called ‘the Euthyphro dilemma’. If we try to define the holy as what is loved by all the gods (and goddesses), we will be faced with the question ‘Is the holy holy because it is loved by the gods, or do they love it because it is holy?’ (Euthyphro, 10a). Socrates makes it clear that his view is the second (though he does not argue for this conclusion in addressing this question, and he is probably relying on the earlier premise, at Euthyphro, 7c10f, that we love things because of the properties they have). (See Hare, Plato's Euthyphro, on this passage.) But his view is not an objection to tying morality and religion together. He hints at the end of the dialogue (Euthyphro, 13de) that the right way to link them is to see that when we do good we are serving the gods well. Plato probably does not intend for us to construe the dialogues together as a single philosophical system, and we must not erase the differences between them. But it is significant that in the Theaetetus (176b), Socrates says again that our goal is to be as like the god as possible, and since the god is in no way and in no manner unjust, but as just as it is possible to be, nothing is more like the god than the one among us who becomes correspondingly as just as possible. In several dialogues this thought is connected with a belief in the immortality of the soul; we become like the god by paying attention to the immortal and best part of ourselves (e.g., Symposium, 210A-212B). The doctrine of the immortality of the soul is also tied to the doctrine of the Forms, whereby things with characteristics that we experience in this life (e.g., beauty) are copies or imitations of the Forms (e.g., The Beautiful-Itself) that we see without the distraction of the body when our souls are separated at death. The Form of the Good, according to the Republic, is above all the other Forms and gives them their intelligibility (as, by analogy, the sun gives visibility), and is (in a pregnant phrase) ‘on the other side of being’ (Republic, 509b). Finally, in the Laws (716b), perhaps Plato's last work, the character called ‘the Athenian’ says that the god can serve for us in the highest degree as a measure of all things, and much more than any human can, whatever some people say; so people who are going to be friends with such a god must, as far as their powers allow, be like the gods themselves.

This train of thought sees the god or gods as like a magnet, drawing us to be like them by the power of their goodness or excellence. In Plato's Ion (533d), the divine is compared to a magnet to which is attached a chain of rings, through which the attraction is passed. This conception is also pervasive in Aristotle (384–22), Plato's student for twenty years. In the Nicomachean Ethics, for example, the words ‘god’ and ‘divine’ occur roughly twice as often as the words ‘happiness’ and ‘happy’. This is significant, given that Aristotle's ethical theory is (like Plato's) ‘eudaimonist’ (meaning that our morality aims at our happiness). Mention of the divine is not merely conventional for Aristotle, but does important philosophical work. In the Eudemian Ethics (1249b5–22) he tells us that the goal of our lives is service and contemplation of the god. He thinks that we become like what we contemplate, and so we become most like the god by contemplating the god. Incidentally, this is why the god does not contemplate us; for this would mean becoming less than the god, which is impossible. As in Plato, the well-being of the city takes precedence over the individual, and this, too, is justified theologically. It is nobler and more divine to achieve an end for a city than for an individual (NE 1094b9–10). Aristotle draws a distinction between what we honor and what we merely commend (NE, 1101b10–35). There are six states for a human life, on a normative scale from best to worst: divine (which exceeds the merely human on the one extreme), virtuous (without wrongful desire), strong-willed (able to overcome wrongful desire), weak-willed (unable to do so), vicious and bestial (which exceeds the merely human on the other extreme, and which Aristotle says is mostly found among barbarians) (NE, 1145a15–22). The highest form of happiness, which he calls blessedness, is something we honor as we honor gods, whereas virtue we merely commend. It would be as wrong to commend blessedness as it would be to commend gods (NE, 1096a10–1097a15). Sometimes Aristotle uses the phrase ‘God or understanding’ (in Greek, nous) (e.g., Politics, 1287a27–32). The activity of the god, he says in the Metaphysics, is nous thinking itself (1074b34). The best human activity is the most god-like, namely thinking about the god and about things that do not change. Aristotle's virtue ethics, then, needs to be understood against the background of these theological premises. He is thinking of the divine, to use Plato's metaphor, as magnetic, drawing us, by its attractive power, to live the best kind of life possible for us. This gives him a defense against the charge sometimes made against virtue theories that they simply embed the prevailing social consensus into an account of human nature. Aristotle defines ethical virtue as lying in a mean between excess and defect, and the mean is determined by the person of practical wisdom (actually the male, since Aristotle is sexist on this point). He then gives a conventional account of the virtues such a person displays (such as courage, literally manliness, which requires the right amount of fear and confidence, between cowardice and rashness). But the virtuous person in each case acts ‘for the sake of the noble (or beautiful)’, and Aristotle continually associates the noble with the divine (e.g., NE, 1115b12).

There are tensions in Aristotle's account of virtue and happiness. It is not clear whether the Nicomachean Ethics has a consistent view of the relation between the activity of contemplation and the other activities of a virtuous life (see Hare, God and Morality, chapter 1, and Sarah Broadie, Ethics with Aristotle, chapter 7). But the connection of the highest human state with the divine is pervasive in the text. One result of this connection is the eudaimonism mentioned earlier. If the god does not care about what is not divine (for this would be to become like what is not divine), the highest and most god-like human also does not care about other human beings except to the degree they contribute to his own best state. This degree is not negligible, since humans are social animals, and their well-being depends on the well-being of the families and cities of which they are members. Aristotle is not preaching self-sufficiency in any sense that implies we could be happy on our own, isolated from other human beings. But our concern for the well-being of other people is always, for him, contingent on our special relation to them. Within the highest kind of friendship ‘a friend is another self’, he says, and within such friendship we care about friends for their own sake, but if the friend becomes divine and we do not, then the friendship is over (NE, 1159a7). We therefore do not want our friends to become gods, even though that would be the best thing for them. Finally, Aristotle ties our happiness to our end (in Greek, telos); for humans, as for all living things, the best state is its own activity in accordance with the natural function that is unique to each species. For humans the best state is happiness, and the best activity within this state is contemplation (NE, 1178b17–23).

The Epicureans and Stoics who followed Aristotle differed with each other and with him in many ways, but they agreed in tying morality and religion together. For the Epicureans, the gods do not care about us, though they are entertained by looking at our tragicomic lives (rather as we look at soap operas on television). We can be released from a good deal of anxiety, the Epicureans thought, by realizing that the gods are not going to punish us. Our goal should be to be as like the gods as we can, enjoying ourselves without interruption, but for us this means limiting our desires to what we can obtain without frustration. They did not mean that our happiness is self-interested in any narrow sense, because they held that we can include others in our happiness by means of our sympathetic pleasures. The Stoics likewise tied the best kind of human life, for them the life of the sage, to being like the divine. The sage follows nature in all his desires and actions, and is thus the closest to the divine. One of the virtues he will have is ‘apathy’ (in Greek apatheia), which does not mean listlessness, but detachment from wanting anything other than what nature, or the god, is already providing. Like the Epicureans, the Stoics had an argument against any narrow self-interest, but this time based on their conception of right reason which is directed by the law common to all, ‘which pervades everything and is the same as Zeus, lord of the ordering of all that exists’ (Diogenes Laertius, Lives of the Philosophers, VII 88. For the views of the Epicureans and Stoics about morality and religion, see Julia Annas, The Morality of Happiness, chapters 5 and 7.)

2. The Hebrew Bible And The New Testament

The second line of thought to be traced in this entry starts with the Hebrew Bible and continues with the Greek scriptures called by Christians ‘The New Testament’. Morality and religion are connected in the Hebrew Bible primarily by the category of God's command. Such commands come already in the first chapter of Genesis. God created by command, for example ‘Let there be light’ (Gen. 1:3). Then, after the creation of animals, God gives the command, ‘Be fruitful and multiply’, and repeats the command to the humans he creates in the divine image (Gen. 1:22). In the second chapter God tells Adam that he is free to eat from any tree in the garden, but he must not eat from the tree of the knowledge of good and evil. When Eve and Adam disobey and eat of that fruit, they are expelled from the garden. There is a family of concepts here that is different from what we met in Greek philosophy. God is setting up a kind of covenant by which humans will be blessed if they obey the commands God gives them. Human disobedience is not explained in the text, except that the serpent says to Eve that they will not die if they eat the fruit, but will be like God, knowing good and evil, and Eve sees the fruit as good for food and pleasing to the eye and desirable for gaining wisdom. After they eat, Adam and Eve know that they are naked, and are ashamed, and hide from God. There is a turning away from God and from obedience to God that characterizes this as a ‘fall into sin’. As the story goes on, and Cain kills Abel, evil spreads to all the people of the earth, and Genesis describes the basic state as a corruption of the heart (6:9). This idea of a basic orientation away from or towards God and God's commands becomes in the Patristic period of early Christianity the idea of a will. There is no such idea in Plato or Aristotle, and no Greek word that the English word ‘will’ properly translates.

In the Pentateuch, the story continues with Abraham, and God's command to leave his ancestral land and go to the land God promised to give him and his offspring (Gen. 17:7–8). Then there is the command to Abraham to kill his son, a deed prevented at the last minute by the provision of a ram instead (Gen. 22:11–14). Abraham's great grandchildren end up in Egypt, because of famine, and the people of Israel suffer for generations under Pharaoh's yoke. Under Moses the people are finally liberated, and during their wanderings in the desert, Moses receives from God the Ten Commandments, in two tables or tablets (Exod. 20:1–17, 31:18). The first table concerns our obligations to God directly, to worship God alone and keep God's name holy, and keep the Sabbath. The second table concerns our obligations to other human beings, and all of the commands are negative (do not kill, commit adultery, steal, lie, or covet) except for the first, which tells us to honor our fathers and mothers. God's commands taken together give us the law (on some lists there are 613 mitzvot, Hebrew for ‘commands’.) One more term belongs here, namely ‘kingdom’. The Greeks had the notion of a kingdom, under a human king (though the Athenians were in the classical period suspicious of such an arrangement). But they did not have the idea of a kingdom of God, though there is something approaching this in some of the Stoics. This idea is explicable in terms of law, and is introduced as such in Exodus in connection with the covenant on Mt. Sinai. The kingdom is the realm in which the laws obtain.

This raises a question about the extent of this realm. The Ten Commandments are given in the context of a covenant with the people of Israel, though there are references to God's intention to bless the whole world through this covenant. The surrounding laws in the Pentateuch include prescriptions and proscriptions about ritual purity and sacrifice and the use of the land that seem to apply to this particular people in this particular place. But the covenant that God makes with Noah after the flood is applicable to the whole human race, and universal scope is explicit in the Wisdom books, which make a continual connection between how we should live and how we were created as human beings. For example, in Proverbs 8 Wisdom raises her voice to all humankind, and says that she detests wickedness, which she goes on to describe in considerable detail. She says that she was the artisan at God's side when God created the world and its inhabitants. Judaism distinguishes seven ‘Noahide’ laws given to Noah before the covenant with Abraham.

In the writings which Christians call ‘The New Testament’ the theme of God's commands is recapitulated. Jesus sums up the commandments under two, the command to love God with all one's heart and soul and mind (see Deuteronomy 6:5), and the command to love the neighbor as the self (see Leviticus 19:18). The first of these probably sums up the first ‘table’ of the Ten Commandments to Moses, and the second sums up the second. The New Testament is unlike the Hebrew Bible, however, in presenting a narrative about a man who is the perfect exemplification of obedience and who has a life without sin. New Testament scholars disagree about the extent to which Jesus actually claimed to be God, but the traditional interpretation is that he did make this claim; in any case the Christian doctrine is that we can see in his life the clearest possible revelation in human terms both of what God is like and at the same time of what our lives ought to be like. In the ‘Sermon on the Mount’ (Matthew 5–7) Jesus issues a number of radical injunctions. He takes the commandments inside the heart; for example, we are required not merely not to murder, but not to be angry, and not merely not to commit adultery, but not to lust (see Ezekiel 11:19, ‘I will give them a heart of flesh, that they may walk in my statutes.’) We are told, if someone strikes us on the right cheek, to turn to him also the left. Jesus tells us to love our enemies and those who hate and persecute us, and in this way he makes it clear that the love commandment is not based on reciprocity (Matt 5:43–48; Luke 6:27–36). Finally, when he is asked ‘Who is my neighbor?’, he tells the story (Luke 10) of a Samaritan (traditional enemies of the Jews) who met a wounded Jew he did not know by the side of the road, was moved with compassion, and went out of his way to meet his needs; Jesus commends the Samaritan for being ‘neighbor’ to the wounded traveler.

The theme of self-sacrifice is clearest in the part of the narrative that deals with Jesus' death. This event is understood in many different ways in the New Testament, but one central theme is that Jesus died on our behalf, an innocent man on behalf of the guilty. Jesus describes the paradigm of loving our neighbors as the willingness to die for them. This theme is connected with our relationship to God, which we violate by disobedience, but which is restored by God's forgiveness through redemption. In Paul's letters especially we are given a three-fold temporal location for the relation of morality to God's work on our behalf. We are forgiven for our past failures on the basis of Jesus' sacrifice (Rom. 3:21–26). We are reconciled now with God through God's adoption of us in Christ (Rom. 8:14–19). And we are given the hope of future progress in holiness by the work of the Holy Spirit (Rom. 5:3–5). All of this theology requires more detailed analysis, but this is not the place for it.

There is a contrast between the two traditions I have so far described, namely the Greek and the Judeo-Christian. The idea of God that is central in Greek philosophy is the idea of God attracting us, like a kind of magnet, so that we desire to become more like God, though there is a minority account by Socrates of receiving divine commands. In the Jewish and Christian scriptures, the notion of God commanding us is central. It is tempting to simplify this contrast by saying that the Greeks favor the good, in their account of the relation of morality and religion, and the Judeo-Christian account favors the right or obligation. It is true that the notion of obligation makes most sense against the background of command. But the picture is over-simple because the Greeks had room in their account for the constraint of desire; thus the temperate or brave person in Aristotle's picture has desires for food or sex or safety that have to be disciplined by the love of the noble. On the other side, the Judeo-Christian account adds God's love to the notion of God's command, so that the covenant in which the commands are embedded is a covenant by which God blesses us, and we are given a route towards our highest good which is union with God.

3. The Middle Ages

The rest of the history to be described in this entry is a cross-fertilization of these two traditions or lines of thought. In the patristic period, or the period of the early Fathers, it was predominantly Plato and the Stoics amongst the Greek philosophers whose influence was felt. The Eastern and Western parts of the Christian church split during the period, and the Eastern church remained more comfortable than the Western with language about humans being deified (in Greek theosis). In the Western church, Augustine (354–430) emphasized the gap between the world we are in as resident aliens and our citizenship in the heavenly Jerusalem, and even in our next life the distance between ourselves and God. He describes in the Confessions the route by which his heart or will, together with his understanding, moved from paganism through Neo-Platonism to Christianity. The Neo-Platonists (such as Plotinus, 205-270) taught a world-system of emanation, whereby the One (like Plato's Form of the Good) flowed into Intellect (the realm of the Forms) and from there into the World-Soul and individual souls, where it encountered the realm of bodies, from where it returned to itself (‘the flight of the alone to the alone’). Augustine accepted that the Platonists taught, like the beginning of the prologue of John, that the Word (in Greek, logos) is with God and is God, since the Intellect is the mediating principle between the One and the Many (John 1:1–5). Augustine held that Plato had asserted that the supreme good, possession of which alone gives us blessedness, is God, ‘and therefore (Plato) thought that to be a philosopher is to be a lover of God.’ (De Civ. Dei VIII.8). But the Platonists did not teach, like the end of John's prologue, that the Word is made flesh in Jesus Christ, and so they did not have access to the way to salvation revealed in Christ or God's grace to us through Christ's death. Nonetheless, it is surprising how far Augustine can go in rapprochement. The Forms, he says, are in the mind of God and God uses them in the creation of the world. Human beings were created for union with God, but they have the freedom to turn towards themselves instead of God. If they turn to God, they can receive divine illumination through a personal intuition of the eternal standards (the Forms). If they turn towards themselves, they will lose the sense of the order of creation, which the order of their own loves should reflect. Augustine gives primacy to the virtue of loving what ought to be loved, especially God. In his homily on I John 4:8, he says, ‘Love and do what you will.’ But this is not a denial of the moral law. He held that humans who truly love God will also act in accord with the other precepts of divine and moral law; though love not merely fulfills the cardinal virtues (wisdom, justice, courage and temperance) but transforms them by supernatural grace.

The influence of Augustine in the subsequent history of ethics resulted from the fact that it was his synthesis of Christianity (the official religion of the Roman Empire after 325) and Greek philosophy that survived the destruction of the Western Roman Empire, especially in the monasteries where the texts were still read. Boethius (c. 480–524) gave us the definition of the concept of ‘person’ that has been fundamental to ethical theory. To understand this, we need to go back into the history of the development of the doctrine of the Trinity. The church had to explain how the Father, the Son and the Holy Spirit could be distinct and yet not three different gods. They used, in Latin, the term persona, which means ‘role’ but which was also used by the grammarians to distinguish what we call ‘first person, second person and third person’ pronouns and verb-forms. The same human being can be first person ‘I’, second person ‘you’, and third person ‘he’ or ‘she’, depending on the relations in which he or she stands. The doctrine of the Trinity comes to be understood in terms of three persons, one God, with the persons standing in different relations to each other. But then this term ‘person’ is also used to understand the relation of the second person's divinity to his humanity. The church came to talk about one person with two natures, the person standing under the natures. This had the merit of not making either the humanity or the divinity less essential to who Jesus was. Plato and Aristotle did not have any term that we can translate ‘person’ in the modern sense, as someone (as opposed to something) that stands under all his or her attributes. Boethius, however, defines ‘person’ as ‘individual substance of rational nature,’ a key step in the introduction of our present concept.

In the West knowledge of most of Aristotle's texts was lost, but not in the East. They were translated into Syriac, and Arabic, and eventually (in Muslim Spain) into Latin, and re-entered Christian Europe in the twelfth century accompanied by translations of the great Arabic commentaries. In the initial prophetic period of Islam (CE 610–32) the Qur'an was given to Mohammad, who explained it and reinforced it through his own teachings and practices. The notion of God's (Allah's) commands is again central, and our obedience to these commands is the basis of our eventual resurrection. Disputes about political authority in the period after Mohammad's death led to the split between Sunnis and Shiites. Within Sunni Muslim ethical theory in the Middle Ages two major alternative ways developed of thinking about the relation between morality and religion. The first, the Mu'tazilite, was given its most developed statement by ‘Abd al-Jabbar from Basra (d. 1025). ‘Abd al-Jabbar defines a wrongful act as one that deserves blame, and holds that the right and wrong character of acts is known immediately to human reason, independently of revelation. These standards that we learn from reason apply also to God, so that we can use them to judge what God is and is not commanding us to do. He also teaches that humans have freedom, in the sense of a power to perform both an act and its opposite, though not at the same time. (For Mu'tazilite ethical theory, see Sophia Vasalou, Moral Agents and Their Deserts: The Character of Mu'tazilite Ethics and George Hourani, Islamic Rationalism: The Ethics of ‘Abd al-Jabbar.) The second alternative was taught by al-Ashari (d. 935), who started off as a Mu'tazilite, but came to reject their view. He insists that God is subject to none and to no standard that can fix bounds for Him. Nothing can be wrong for God, who sets the standard of right and wrong. This means that ‘if God declared lying to be right, it would be right, and if He commanded it, none could gainsay Him’ (The Theology of al-Ash'ari, 169-70). With respect to our freedom, he holds that God gives us only the power to do the act (not its opposite) and this power is simultaneous to the act and does not precede it. A figure contemporary with al-Ashari, but in some ways intermediate between Mu'tazilites and Asharites, is al-Maturidi of Samarqand (d. 944). He holds that because humans have the tendency in their nature towards ugly or harmful actions as well as beautiful or beneficial ones, God has to reveal to us by command what to pursue and what to avoid. He also teaches that God gives us two different kinds of power, both the power simultaneous with the act (which is simply to do the act) and the power preceding the act (to choose either the act or its opposite). (For the work of al-Maturidi, see Ulrich Rudolph, Al-Maturidi and Sunni Theology in Samarkand.)

Medieval reflection within Judaism about morality and religion has, as its most significant figure, Maimonides (d. 1204) who was born in Muslim Spain, and was familiar with much of the Muslim discussion of these questions. The Guide of the Perplexed was written for young men who had read Aristotle and were worried about the tension between the views of the philosopher and their faith. Maimonides teaches that we do indeed have some access just as human beings to the rightness and wrongness of acts; but what renders conforming to these standards obligatory is that God reveals them in special revelation. The laws are obligatory whether we understand the reasons for them or not, but sometimes we do see how it is beneficial to obey, and Maimonides is remarkably fertile in providing such reasons.

The reentry of Aristotle into Europe caused a rebirth (a ‘renaissance’), but it also gave rise to a crisis, because it threatened to undermine the harmony established from the time of Augustine between the authority of reason, as represented by Greek philosophy, and the authority of faith, as represented by the doctrines of the Christian church. There were especially three ‘errors of Aristotle’ that seemed threatening: his teaching that the world was eternal, his apparent denial of personal immortality, and his denial of God's active agency in the world. (See, for example, Bonaventure, In Hexaemeron, VI.5 and In II Sent., lib. II, d.1, pars 1, a.1, q.2.) These three issues (‘the world, the soul, and God’) become in one form or another the focus of philosophical thought for the next six centuries.

Thomas Aquinas (c. 1224–74) undertook the project of synthesis between Aristotle and Christianity, though his version of Christianity was already deeply influenced by Augustine, and so by Neo-Platonism. Aquinas, like Aristotle, emphasized the ends (vegetative, animal and typically human) given to humans in the natural order. He described both the cardinal virtues and the theological virtues of faith, hope and love, but he did not feel the tension that current virtue ethicists sometimes feel between virtue and the following of rules or principles. The rules governing how we ought to live are known, some of them by revelation, some of them by ordinary natural experience and rational reflection. But Aquinas thought these rules consistent in the determination of our good, since God only requires us to do what is consistent with our own good. Aquinas's theory is eudaimonist; ‘And so the will naturally tends towards its own last end, for every man naturally wills beatitude. And from this natural willing are caused all other willings, since whatever a man wills, he wills on account of the end.’ (Summa Theologiae I, q.60. a.2) God's will is not exercised by arbitrary fiat; but what is good for some human being can be understood as fitting for this kind of agent, in relation to the purpose this agent intends to accomplish, in the real environment of the action, including other persons individually and collectively. The principles of natural moral law are the universal judgments made by right reasoning about the kinds of actions that are morally appropriate and inappropriate for human agents. They are thus, at least in principle and at a highly general level, deducible from human nature. Aquinas held that reason, in knowing these principles, is participating in the eternal law, which is in the mind of God (Summa Theologiae I, q.91. a.2). Aquinas was not initially successful in persuading the church to embrace Aristotle. In 1277 the Bishop of Paris condemned 219 propositions (not all Thomist), including the thesis that a person virtuous in Aristotle's terms ‘is sufficiently disposed for eternal happiness.’ But in the Counter-Reformation, the synthesis which Aquinas achieved became authoritative in Roman Catholic education.

Aquinas was a Dominican friar. The other major order of friars, the Franciscan, had its own school of philosophy, starting with Bonaventure (c. 1217–74), who held that while we can learn from both Plato and Aristotle, and both are also in error, the greater error is Aristotle's. One other major figure from this tradition is John Duns Scotus (literally John from Duns, the Scot, c. 1266–1308), and there are three significant differences between him and Aquinas on the relation between morality and religion. First, Scotus is not a eudaimonist. He takes a double account of motivation from Anselm (1033–1109), who made the distinction between two affections of the will, the affection for advantage (an inclination towards one's own happiness and perfection) and the affection for justice (an inclination towards what is good in itself independent of advantage) (Anselm, De Concordia 3.11, 281:7–10; De Casu Diaboli 12, 255:8–11). Original sin is a ranking of advantage over justice, which needs to be reversed by God's assistance before we can be pleasing to God. Scotus says that we should be willing to sacrifice our own happiness for God if God were to require this. Second, he does not think that the moral law is self-evident or necessary. He takes the first table to be necessary, since it derives (except for the ‘every seventh day’ provision of the command about the Sabbath) from the necessary principle that God is to be loved. But the second table is contingent, though fitting our nature, and God could prescribe different commands even for human beings (Ord. I, dist. 44). One of his examples is the proscription on theft, which applies only to beings with property, and so not necessarily to human beings (since they are not necessarily propertied). God also gives dispensation from the commands, according to Scotus, for example the command to Abraham to kill Isaac (Ord III, suppl. Dist. 37). Third, Scotus denied the application of teleology to non-intentional nature, and thus departed from the Aristotelian and Thomist view. This does not mean that we have no natural end or telos, but that this end is related to the intention of God in the same way a human artisan intends his or her products to have a certain purpose (see Hare 2006, chapter 2).

4. Modern Philosophy

Europe experienced a second Renaissance when scholars fled Constantinople after its capture by the Muslims in 1453, and brought with them Greek manuscripts that were previously inaccessible. In Florence Marsilio Ficino (1433–99) identified Plato as the primary ancient teacher of wisdom, and (like Bonaventure) cited Augustine as his guide in elevating Plato in this way. His choice of Plato was determined by the harmony he believed to exist between Plato's thought and the Christian faith, and he set about making Latin translations of all the Platonic texts so that this wisdom could be available for his contemporaries who did not know Greek. He was also the first Latin translator of Plotinus, the Neo-Platonist.

Many of the central figures in the Reformation were humanists in the Renaissance sense (where there is no implication of atheism). But there is also a fundamental similarity in the way the relation between morality and religion is conceived between Scotus and the two Reformers Martin Luther (1483–1546) and John Calvin (1509–64), though neither of them make the distinctions about natural law that Scotus (the ‘subtle doctor’) does. Luther says ‘What God wills is not right because he ought or was bound so to will; on the contrary, what takes place must be right, because he so wills.’ (Bondage of the Will, Works, pp. 195–6). Calvin says ‘God's will is so much the highest rule of righteousness that whatever he wills, by the very fact that he wills it, must be considered righteous’ (Institutes 3. 23. 2). The historical connection between Scotus and the Reformers can be traced through William of Ockham (d. 1349) and Gabriel Biel (1410–95). The Counter-Reformation in Roman Catholic Europe, on the other hand, took the work of Aquinas as authoritative for education. Francisco de Suarez (1548–1617) claimed that the precepts of natural law can be distinguished into those (like ‘Do good and avoid evil’) which are known immediately and intuitively by all normal human beings, those (like ‘Do no injury to anyone’) which require experience and thought to know them, but which are then self-evident, and those (like ‘Lying is always immoral’) which are not self-evident but can be derived from the more basic precepts (De Legibus, 2. 7. 5). However, Suarez accepted Scotus's double account of motivation.

The next two centuries in European philosophy can be described in terms of two lines of development, rationalism and empiricism, both of which led, in different ways, to the possibility of a greater detachment of ethics from theology. The history of rationalism from René Descartes (1596–1650) to Gottfried Wilhelm Leibniz (1646–1716) is a history of re-establishing human knowledge on the foundation of rational principles that could not be doubted, after modern science started to shake the traditional foundations supported by the authority of Greek philosophy and the church. Descartes was not primarily an ethicist, but he located the source of moral law (surprisingly for a rationalist) in God's will. The most important rationalist in ethics was Benedict de Spinoza (1623–77). He was a Jew, but was condemned by his contemporary faith community as unorthodox. Like Descartes, he attempted to duplicate the methods of geometry in philosophy. Substance, according to Spinoza, exists in itself and is conceived through itself (Ethics, I, def. 3); it is consequently one, infinite, and identical with God (Ethics, I, prop. 15). There is no such thing as natural law, since all events in nature (‘God or Nature’) are equally natural. Everything in the universe is necessary, and there is no free will, except in as far as Spinoza is in favor of calling someone free who is led by reason ( Ethics, I, prop. 32). Each human mind is a limited aspect of the divine intellect. On this view (which has its antecedent in Stoicism) the human task is to move towards the greatest possible rational control of human life. Leibniz was, like Descartes, not primarily an ethicist. He said, however, that ‘the highest perfection of any thinking being lies in careful and constant pursuit of true happiness’ (New Essays on Human Understanding, XXI, 51). The rationalists were not denying the centrality of God in human moral life, but their emphasis was on the access we have through the light of reason rather than through sacred text or ecclesiastical authority.

After Leibniz there was in Germany a long-running battle between the rationalists and the pietists, who tried to remain true to the goals of the Lutheran Reformation. Examples of the two schools are Christian Wolff (1679–1754) and Christian August Crusius (1715–75), and we can understand Immanuel Kant (1724–1804), like his teacher Martin Knutzen (1713–51), as trying to mediate between the two. Wolff was a very successful popularizer of the thought of Leibniz, but fuller in his ethical system. He took from Leibniz the principle that we will always select what pleases us most, and the principle that pleasure is the apprehension of perfection, so that the amount of pleasure we feel is proportional to the amount of perfection we intuit (New Essays on Human Understanding, XXI, 41). He thought we are obligated to do what will make us and our condition, or that of others, more perfect, and this is the law of nature that would be binding on us even if (per impossible) God did not exist. He saw no problem about the connection between virtue and happiness, since both of them result directly from our perfection, and no problem about the connection between virtue and duty, since a duty is simply an act in accordance with law, which prescribes the pursuit of perfection. His views were offensive to the pietists, because he claimed that Confucius already knew (by reason) all that mattered about morality, even though he did not know anything about Christ. Crusius by contrast accepted Scotus's double theory of motivation, and held that there are actions that we ought to do regardless of any ends we have, even the end of our own perfection and happiness. It is plausible to see here the origin of Kant's categorical imperative. But he also added a third motivation, what he called ‘the drive of conscience’ which is ‘the natural drive to recognize a divine moral law’ (“A Guide to Rational Living,” Moral Philosophy from Montaigne to Kant, §132, 574). His idea was that we have within us this separate capacity to recognize divine command and to be drawn towards it out of a sense of dependence on the God who prescribes the command to us, and will punish us if we disobey (though our motive should not be to avoid punishment) (Ibid., §135).

The history of empiricism in Britain from Hobbes to Hume is also the history of the attempt to re-establish human knowledge, but not from above (from indubitable principles of reason) but from below (from experience and especially the experience of the senses). Thomas Hobbes (1588–1649) said that all reality is bodily (including God), and all events are motions in space. Willing, then, is a motion, and is merely the last act of desire or aversion in any process of deliberation. His view is that it is natural, and so reasonable, for each of us to aim solely at our own preservation or pleasure. In the state of nature, humans are selfish, and their lives are ‘solitary, poor, nasty, brutish, and short’, a war of all against all (Leviathan, Ch. 13). The first precept of the law of nature is then for each of us, pursuing our own interest, ‘to endeavor peace, as far as he has hope of attaining it; and when he cannot obtain it, that he may seek, and use, all helps, and advantages of war.’ (Ibid., Ch. 14). The second precept is that each of us should be willing to lay down our natural rights to everything to the extent that others are also willing, and Hobbes concludes with the need to subordinate ourselves to a sovereign who alone will be able to secure peace. The second and longest portion of Leviathan is devoted to religion, where Hobbes argues for the authority of Scripture (‘God's word’), which he thinks is needed for the authority of law. He argues for the authority in the interpretation of Scripture to be given to that same earthly sovereign, and not to competing ecclesiastical authorities (whose competition had been seen to exacerbate the miseries of war both in Britain and on the continent) (Ibid., Ch. 33).

John Locke (1632–1704) followed Hobbes in deriving morality from our need to live together in peace given our natural discord, but he denied that we are mechanically moved by our desires. He agreed with Hobbes in saying that moral laws are God's imposition, but disagreed by making God's power and benevolence both necessary conditions for God's authority in this respect (Treatises, IV. XIII. 3). He also held that our reason can work out counsels or advice about moral matters; but only God's imposition makes law (and hence obligation), and we only know about God's imposition from revelation (The Reasonableness of Christianity, 62–5). He therefore devoted considerable attention to justifying our belief in the reliability of revelation.

The deists (e.g., William Wollaston, 1659–1724) believed that humans can reason from their experience of nature to the existence and some of the attributes of God, that special revelation is accordingly unnecessary, that God does not intervene in human affairs (after creation) and that the good life for humans finds adequate guidance in philosophical ethics. Frances Hutcheson (1694–1746) was not a deist, but does give a reading of the sort of guidance involved here. He distinguished between objects that are naturally good, which excite personal or selfish pleasure, and those that are morally good, which are advantageous to all persons affected. He took himself to be giving a reading of moral goodness as agape, the Greek word for the love of our neighbor that Jesus prescribes. This love is benevolence, Hutcheson said, and it is formulated in the principle ‘That Action is best, which procures the greatest Happiness for the greatest Numbers’ (Inquiry II, III, VIII). Because these definitions of natural and moral good produce a possible gap between the two, we need some way to believe that morality and happiness are coincident. Hutcheson thought that God has given us a moral sense for this purpose (Essay on the Nature and Conduct of the Passions, II). This moral sense responds to examples of benevolence with approbation and a unique kind of pleasure, and benevolence is the only thing it responds to, as it were the only signal it picks up. It is, like Scotus's affection for justice, not confined to our perception of advantage. The result of our having moral sense is that when intending the good of others, we ‘undesignedly’ end up promoting our own greatest good as well because we end up gratifying ourselves along with others. God shows benevolence by first making us benevolent and then giving us this moral sense that gets joy from the approbation of our benevolence. To contemporary British opponents of moral sense theory, this seemed too rosy or benign a picture; our joy in approving benevolence is not enough to make morality and happiness coincident. We need also obligation and divine sanction.

Joseph Butler (1692–1752, Bishop of Bristol and then of Durham) held that God's goodness consists in benevolence, in wanting us to be happy, and that we should want the same for each other. He made the important point that something can be good for an agent because it is what he wants without this meaning that the content of what he wants has anything to do with himself (Fifteen Sermons, 126–27).

David Hume (1711–76) is the first figure in this narrative who can properly be attached to the Enlightenment, though this term means very different things in Scotland, in France and in Germany. Hume held that reason cannot command or move the human will. Since morals clearly do have an influence on actions and affections, ‘it follows that they cannot be derived from reason; and that because reason alone, as we have already proved, can never have any such influence’ (Treatise III.1). For Hume an action, or sentiment, or character, is virtuous or vicious ‘because its view causes a pleasure or uneasiness of a particular kind’ (Ibid., III.2). The denial of motive power to reason is part of his general skepticism. He accepted from Locke the principle that our knowledge is restricted to sense impressions from experience and logically necessary relations of ideas in advance of experience (in Latin, a priori). From this principle he derived more radical conclusions than Locke had done. For example, we cannot know about causation or the soul. The only thing we can know about morals is that we get pleasure from the thought of some things and pain from the thought of others. Since the idea of morality implies something universal, there must be some sentiment of sympathy or (he later says) humanity, which is common to all human beings, and which ‘recommends the same object to general approbation’ (Enquiry Concerning the Principles of Morals, IX. I. 221). Hume thought we could get conventional moral conclusions from these moral sentiments, which nature has fortunately given us. He was also skeptical about any attempt to derive conclusions containing ‘ought’ from premises containing only ‘is’, though scholars debate about the scope of the premises he is talking about here. Probably he included premises about God's will or nature or action. This does not mean he was arguing against the existence of God. He thought (like Calvin) that we cannot rely on rational proofs of God's existence, even though humans have what Calvin called a sense of the divine and Human called ‘true religion’. But Hume never identified himself as an atheist, though he had opportunity in the atheist circles he frequented in Paris, and his Dialogues on Natural Religion end with the sentiment that ‘to be a philosophical skeptic is, in a man of letters, the first and most essential step towards being a sound, believing Christian’ (Dialogues, part XII, penultimate paragraph). Some scholars take this remark (like similar statements in Hobbes) as purely ironic, but this goes beyond the evidence.

The Enlightenment in France had a more anti-clerical flavor (in part because of the history of Jansenism, unique to France), and for the first time in this narrative we meet genuine atheists, such as Baron d'Holbach (1723–89) who held not only that morality did not need religion, but that religion, and especially Christianity, was its major impediment. François-Marie Voltaire (1694-1778) was, especially towards the end of his life, opposed to Christianity, but not to religion in general (Letters of Voltaire and Frederick the Great, letter 156). He accepted from the English deists the idea that what is true in Christian teachings is the core of human values that are universally true in all religions, and (like the German rationalists) he admired Confucius. Jean-Jacques Rousseau (1712-78) said, famously, that mankind is born free, but everywhere he is in chains (The Social Contract, Ch. 1). This supposes a disjunction between nature and contemporary society, and Rousseau held that the life of primitive human beings was happy inasmuch as they knew how to live in accordance with their own innate needs; now we need some kind of social contract to protect us from the corrupting effects of society upon the proper love of self. Nature is understood as the whole realm of being created by God, who guarantees its goodness, unity, and order. Rousseau held that we do not need any intermediary between us and God, and we can attain salvation by returning to nature in this high sense and by developing all our faculties harmoniously. Our ultimate happiness is to feel ourselves at one with the system that God created.

Immanuel Kant (1724–1804) is the most important figure of the Enlightenment in Germany, but his project is different in many ways from those of his French contemporaries. He was brought up in a pietist Lutheran family, and his system retains many features from, for example, Crusius. But he was also indebted through Wolff to Leibniz. Moreover, he was ‘awoken from his dogmatic slumbers’ by reading Hume, though Kant is referring here to Hume's attack on causation, not his ethical theory (Prolegomena, 4:260). Kant's mature project was to limit human knowledge ‘in order to make room for faith’ (KrV, B xxx). He accepted from Hume that our knowledge is confined within the limits of possible sense experience, but he did not accept skeptical conclusions about causation or the soul. Reason is not confined, in his view, to the same limits as knowledge, and we are rationally required to hold beliefs about things as they are in themselves, not merely things as they appear to us. In particular, we are required to believe in God, freedom and immortality. These are three ‘postulates of practical reason’, required to make rational sense of the fact of moral obligation, the fact that we are under the moral law (the ‘categorical imperative’) that requires us to will the maxim of an action (the prescription of the action together with the reason for it) as a universal law (removing any self-preference) and to treat humanity in any person as always at the same time an end and never merely as a means (Groundwork, 4.421, 429). Kant thought that humans have to be able to believe that morality in this demanding form is consistent in the long run with happiness (both their own and that of the people they affect by their actions), if they are going to be able to persevere in the moral life without rational instability. He did not accept the three traditional theoretical arguments for the existence of God (though he was sympathetic to a modest version of the teleological argument). But the practical argument was decisive for him, though he held that it was possible to be morally good without being a theist, despite such a position being rationally unstable.

In Religion within the Boundaries of Mere Reason he undertook the project of using moral language in order to translate the four main themes of Biblical revelation (accessible only to particular people at particular times) into the revelation to Reason (accessible to all people at all times). This does not mean that he intended to reduce Biblical faith to morality, though some scholars have taken him this way. The translated versions of Creation, Fall, Redemption and Second Coming are as follows (see Hare 1996): Humans have an initial predisposition to the good, which is essential to them, but is overlaid with a propensity to evil, which is not essential to them. Since they are born under ‘the Evil Maxim’ that subordinates duty to happiness, they are unable by their own devices to reverse this ranking, and require ‘an effect of grace’ (Religion, 6.53). Providence ushers in progress (though not continuous) towards an ‘ethical commonwealth’ in which we together make the moral law our own law, by appropriating it as authoritative for our own lives (this is what Kant means by ‘autonomy’) (Religion, 6.98–99; Groundwork, 4.433–34).

A whole succession of Kant's followers tried to ‘go beyond’ Kant by showing that there was finally no need to make the separation between our knowledge and the thing-in-itself beyond our knowledge. One key step in departing from the surviving influence in Kant of Lutheran pietism was taken by Johann Gottlieb Fichte (1762–1814), who identified (as Kant did not) the will of the individual with the infinite Ego which is ordering the universe morally. Georg Wilhelm Friedrich Hegel (1770–1831) accomplished a somewhat similar end by proposing that we should make the truth of ideas relative to their original historical context against the background of a history that is progressing towards a final stage of ‘absolute knowledge’, in which Spirit (in German Geist, which means also ‘mind’) understands that reality is its own creation and there is no ‘beyond’ for it to know. Hegel is giving a philosophical account of the Biblical notion of all things returning to God, ‘so that God may be all in all.’ (I Cor. 15:28) In this world-history, Hegel located the Reformation as ‘the all-enlightening sun’ of the bright day that is our modern time (The Philosophy of History, 412). He thought that Geist moves immanently through human history, and that the various stages of knowledge are also stages of freedom, each stage producing first its own internal contradiction, and then a radical transition into a new stage. The stage of absolute freedom will be one in which all members freely by reason endorse the organic community and the concrete institutions in which they actually live (Phenomenology, BB, VI, B, III).

One of Hegel's opponents was Arthur Schopenhauer (1799–1860), the philosopher of pessimism. Schopenhauer thought that Hegel had strayed from the Kantian truth that there is a thing-in-itself beyond appearance, and that the Will is such a thing. He differed from Kant, however, in seeing the Will as the source of all our endless suffering, a blind striving power without ultimate purpose or design (The World as Will and Representation, §56 p. 310 and §57 p. 311). It is, moreover, one universal Will that underlies the wills of all separate individuals. The intellect and its ideas are simply the Will's servant. On this view, there is no happiness for us, and our only consolation is a (quasi-Buddhist) release from the Will to the limited extent we can attain it, especially through aesthetic enjoyment.

Hegel's followers split into what are sometimes called ‘Right Hegelians’ and ‘Left Hegelians’ (or ‘Young Hegelians’). Right Hegelians promoted the generally positive view of the Prussian state that Hegel expressed in the Philosophy of Right. Left Hegelians rejected it, and with it the Protestant Christianity which they saw as its vehicle. In this way Hegel's peculiar way of promoting Christianity ended up causing its vehement rejection by thinkers who shared many of his social ideals. David Friedrich Strauss (1808–74) wrote The Life of Jesus Critically Examined, launching the historical-critical method of Biblical scholarship with the suggestion that much of the Biblical account is myth or ‘unconscious invention’ that needs to be separated out from the historical account. Ludwig Andreas Feuerbach (1804–72) wrote The Essence of Christianity in which he pictured all religion as the means by which ‘man projects his being into objectivity, and then again makes himself an object to this projected image of himself’ (The Essence of Christianity, 30). Feuerbach thought religion resulted from humanity's alienation from itself, and philosophy needed to destroy the religious illusion so that we could learn to love humankind and not divert this love onto an imaginary object. Karl Marx (1818–83) followed Feuerbach in this diagnosis of religion, but he was interested primarily in social and political relations rather than psychology. He became suspicious of theory (for example Hegel's), on the grounds that theory is itself a symptom of the power structures in the societies that produce it. “Theory,” Marx writes, “is realized in a people only in so far as it is a realization of the people's needs” (“Critique of Hegel's Philosophy of Right,” Early Writings, 252). And ‘ideologies’ and ‘religion,’ he believes, arise from “conditions that require [these] illusions” (Ibid., 244). Marx returned to Hegel's thoughts about work revealing to the worker his value through what the worker produces, but Marx argues that under capitalism the worker was alienated from this product because other people owned both the product and the means of producing it. Marx urged that the only way to prevent this was to destroy the institution of private property (“Economic and Philosophic Manuscripts,” Early Writings, 348). Thus he believed, like Hegel, in progress through history towards freedom, but he thought it would take Communist revolution to bring this about.

A very different response to Hegel (and Kant) is found in the work of Søren Kierkegaard (1813–55), a religious thinker who started, like Hegel and Kant, from Lutheranism. Kierkegaard mocked Hegel constantly for presuming to understand the whole system in which human history is embedded, while still being located in a particular small part of it. On the other hand, he used Hegelian categories of thought himself, especially in his idea of the aesthetic life, the ethical life and the religious life as stages through which human beings develop by means of first internal contradiction and then radical transition. Kierkegaard's relation with Kant was problematic as well. In Either/Or he caricatured Kant's ethical thought (as well as Hegel's) in the person of Judge William, who is stuck within the ethical life and has not been able to reach the life of faith. On the other hand, his own description of the religious life is full of echoes of Kant's Religion within the Boundaries of Mere Reason. Kierkegaard wrote most of his work pseudonymously, taking on the names of characters who lived the lives he describes. In the aesthetic life the goal is to keep at bay the boredom that is constantly threatening, and this requires enough distance from one's projects that one is not stuck with them but can flit from engagement to engagement without pain (Either/Or, II. 77). This life deconstructs, because it requires (in order to sustain interest) the very commitment that it also rejects. The transition is accomplished by making a choice for one's life as a whole from a position that is not attached to any particular project, a radical choice that requires admitting the aesthetic life has been a failure. In this choice one discovers freedom, and thus the ethical life (Either/Or, II. 188). But this life too deconstructs, because it sets up the goal of living by a demand, the moral law, that is higher than we can live by our own human devices. Kierkegaard thought we have to realize that God is (contrary to Fichte) ‘another’ (Sickness unto Death xi 128), with whom we have to relate, and whose assistance is necessary even for the kind of repentance that is the transition into the religious life. He also suggested that within the religious life, there is a ‘repetition’ of the aesthetic life and the ethical life, though in a transformed version.

Friedrich Nietzsche (1844–1900) was the son of a Lutheran pastor in Prussia. He was trained as a classical philologist, and his first book, The Birth of Tragedy, was an account of the origin and death of ancient Greek tragedy. Nietzsche was deeply influenced by Schopenhauer, especially his view of the will (which Nietzsche called ‘the Will to Power’), and was first attracted and then repelled by Wagner, who was also one of Schopenhauer's disciples. The breaking point seems to have been Wagner's Parsifal. Nietzsche by this time was opposed to orthodox Christianity and was promoting Ancient Greece instead, and he thought that Wagner was betraying his integrity by using an ‘anti-Greek’ Christian story for the opera. Nietzsche saw clearly the intimate link between Christianity and the ethical theories of his predecessors in Europe, especially Kant. In On the Genealogy of Morals, he says, ‘The advent of the Christian God, as the maximum god attained so far, was therefore accompanied by the maximum feeling of guilty indebtedness on earth. Presuming we have gradually entered upon the reverse course, there is no small probability that with the irresistible decline of faith in the Christian God, there is now also a considerable decline in mankind's feeling of guilt’ (On the Genealogy of Morals, 90–1). This is the ‘death of God’ which Nietzsche announced, and which he predicted would also be the end of Kantian ethics (The Gay Science, §108, 125, 343). It is harder to know what Nietzsche was for, than what he was against. This is partly an inheritance from Schopenhauer, who thought any system of constructive ethical thought a delusion. But Nietzsche clearly admired the Ancient Greeks, and thought we would be better off with a ‘master’ morality like theirs, rather than a ‘slave’ morality like Christianity. ‘Mastery over himself also necessarily gives him mastery over circumstances, over nature, and over all more short-willed and unreliable creatures’ (Genealogy, 59-60). By this last clause, he meant mastery over other people, and the model of this mastery is the ‘overman’ who is free of the resentment by the weak of the strong that Nietzsche thought lay at the basis of Christian ethics.

To return to Britain, Hume had a number of successors who accepted the view (which Hume took from Hutcheson) that our fundamental obligation is to work for the greatest happiness of the greatest number. Four are especially significant. William Paley (1743–1805) thought he could demonstrate that morality derived from the will of God and required promoting the happiness of all, that happiness was the sum of pleasures, and that we need to believe that God is the final granter of happiness if we are to sustain motivation to do what we know we ought to do (The Principles of Moral and Political Philosophy, II. 4). Jeremy Bentham (1748–1832) rejected this theological context. His grounds were radically empiricist, that the only ‘real’ entities are publicly observable, and so do not include God (or, for that matter, right or time or relations or qualities). He thought he could provide a scientific calculus of pleasures, where the unit that stays constant is the minimum state of sensibility that can be distinguished from indifference. He thought we could then separate different ‘dimensions’ in which these units vary, such as intensity, duration, certainty, propinquity (how soon the pleasures will come), fecundity (how many other pleasures this pleasure will produce) and purity. Discarding the theological context made moral motivation problematic, for why should we expect (without God) more units of pleasure for ourselves by contributing to the greater pleasure of others? Bentham's solution was to hope that law and social custom could provide individuals with adequate motives through the threat of social sanctions, and that what he called ‘deontology’ (which is personal or private morality) could mobilize hidden or long-range interests that were already present but obscure.

John Stuart Mill (1806–73) was raised on strict utilitarian principles by his father, a follower of Bentham. Unlike Bentham, however, Mill accepted that there are qualitative differences in pleasures simply as pleasures, and he thought that the higher pleasures were those of the intellect, the feelings and imagination, and the moral sentiments. He observed that those who have experienced both these and the lower pleasures, tend to prefer the former. At the age of twenty he had a collapse and a prolonged period of ‘melancholy’. He realized that his education had neglected the culture or cultivation of feelings, of which hope is a primary instance (Autobiography, 1. 84). In his Three Essays on Religion (published posthumously in 1874) he returned to the idea of hope, saying that ‘the indulgence of hope with regard to the government of the universe and the destiny of man after death, while we recognize as a clear truth that we have no ground for more than a hope, is legitimate and philosophically defensible’; without such hope, we are kept down by ‘the disastrous feeling of “not worth while”’ (Three Essays 249–50). Mill did not believe, however, that God was omnipotent, given all the evil in the world, and he insisted, like Kant, that we have to be God's co-workers, not merely passive recipients of God's assistance.

Henry Sidgwick (1838–1900) in Methods of Ethics distinguished three methods: Intuitionism (which is, roughly, the common sense morality that some things, like deliberate ingratitude to a benefactor, are self-evidently wrong in themselves independently of their consequences), Egoistic Hedonism (the view that self-evidently an individual ought to aim at a maximum balance of happiness for herself, where this is understood as the greatest balance of pleasure over pain), and Utilitarianism or Universalistic Hedonism, (the view that self-evidently she ought to aim at the maximum balance of happiness for all sentient beings present and future, whatever the cost to herself). Of these three, he rejected the first, on the grounds that no concrete ethical principles are self-evident, and that when they conflict (as they do) we have to take consequences into account in order to decide how to act. But Sidgwick found the relation between the other two methods much more problematic. Each principle separately seemed to him self-evident, but when taken together they seems to be mutually inconsistent. He considered two solutions, psychological and metaphysical. The psychological solution was to bring in the pleasures and pains of sympathy, so that if we do good to all we end up (because of these pleasures) making ourselves happiest. Sidgwick rejected this on the basis that sympathy is inevitably limited in its range, and we feel it most towards those closest to us, so that even if we include sympathetic pleasures and pains under Egoism, it will tend to increase the divergence between Egoistic and Utilitarian conduct, rather than bring them closer together. The metaphysical solution was to bring in a god who desires the greatest total good of all living things, and who will reward and punish in accordance with this desire. Sidgwick recognized this as a return to the utilitarianism of Paley (Compare Methods of Ethics, II. 1, 2 and IV. 4, 5). He thought this solution was both necessary and sufficient to remove the contradiction in ethics. But this was only a reason to accept it, if in general it is reasonable to accept certain principles (such as the Uniformity of Nature) which are not self-evident and which cannot be proved, but which bring order and coherence into a central part of our thought. Sidgwick did not commit himself to an answer to this, one way or the other.

5. Contemporary Philosophy

In the twentieth century professional philosophy in the West divided up into two streams, sometimes called ‘Analytic’ and ‘Continental’, and there were periods during which the two schools lost contact with each other. Towards the end of the century, however, there were more philosophers who could speak the languages of both traditions. The beginning of the analytic school is sometimes located with the rejection of a neo-Hegelian idealism by G.E. Moore (1873-1958). One way to characterize the two schools is that the Continental school continued to read and be influenced by Hegel, and the Analytic school (with some exceptions) did not. Another way to make the distinction is geographical; the analytic school is located primarily in Britain, Scandinavia and N. America, and the continental school in the rest of Europe, in Latin America and in certain schools in N. America.

We will start with some figures from the Continental school, and then move to the analytic (which is this writer's own). Martin Heidegger (1889–1976) was initially trained as a theologian, and wrote his dissertation on what he took to be a work of Duns Scotus. He took an appointment under Edmund Husserl (1855–1938) at Freiburg, and was then appointed to succeed him in his chair. Husserl's program of ‘phenomenology’ was to recover a sense of certainty about the world by studying in exhaustive detail the cognitive structure of appearance. Heidegger departed from Husserl in approaching Being through a focus on ‘Human Being’ (in German Dasein) concerned above all for its fate in an alien world, or as ‘anxiety’ (Angst) towards death (see Being and Time I. 6). In this sense he is the first existentialist, though he did not use the term. Heidegger emphasized that we are ‘thrown’ into a world that is not ‘home’, and we have a radical choice about what possibilities for ourselves we will make actual. Heidegger drew here from Kierkegaard, and he is also similar in describing the danger of falling back into mere conventionality, what Heidegger calls ‘the They’ (das Man). On the other hand he is unlike Kierkegaard in thinking of traditional Christianity as just one more convention making authentic existence more difficult. In Heidegger, as in Nietzsche and Schopenhauer, it is hard to find a positive or constructive ethics. Heidegger's position is somewhat compromised, moreover, by his initial embrace of the Nazi party. In his later work he moved increasingly towards a kind of quasi-religious mysticism. His Romantic hatred of the modern world and his distrust of system-building led to the espousal of either silence or poetry as the best way to be open to the ‘something’ (sometimes he says ‘the earth’) which reveals itself only as ‘self-secluding’ or hiding itself away from our various conceptualizations. He held the hope that through poetry, and in particular the poetry of Hölderlin, we might be able to still sense something of the unknown god who appears ‘as the one who remains unknown,’ who is quite different from the object of theology or piety, but who can bring us back to the Being we have long lost sight of (Poetry, Language, Thought, 222).

Jean-Paul Sartre (1905-80) did use the label ‘existentialist’, and said that ‘Existentialism is nothing else than an attempt to draw all the consequences of a coherent atheist position’ (Existentialism and Human Emotions, 51). He denied (like Scotus) that the moral law could be deduced from human nature, but this was because (unlike Scotus) he thought that we give ourselves our own essences by the choices we make. His slogan was, ‘Existence precedes essence’ (Ibid., 13). ‘Essence’ is here the defining property of a thing, and Sartre gave the example of a paper cutter, which is given its definition by the artisan who makes it. Sartre said that when people believed God made human beings, they could believe humans had a God-given essence; but now that we do not believe this, we have realized that humans give themselves their own essences (‘First of all, man exists, turns up, appears on the scene, and, only afterwards, defines himself.’ Ibid., 15). On this view there are no outside commands to appeal to for legitimation, and we are condemned to our own freedom. Sartre thought of human beings as trying to be God (on a Hegelian account of what God is), even though there is no God. This is an inevitably fruitless undertaking, which he called ‘anguish’. Moreover, we inevitably desire to choose not just for ourselves, but for the world. We want, like God, to create humankind in our own image, ‘If I want to marry, to have children, even if this marriage depends solely on my own circumstances or passion or wish, I am involving all humanity in monogamy and not merely myself. Therefore, I am responsible for myself and for everyone else. I am creating a certain image of man of my own choosing. In choosing myself, I choose man’ (Ibid., 18). To recognize that this project does not make sense is required by honesty, and to hide this from ourselves is ‘bad faith’. One form of bad faith is to pretend that there is a God who is giving us our tasks. Another is to pretend that there is a ‘human nature’ that is doing the same thing. To live authentically is to realize both that we create these tasks for ourselves, and that they are futile.

The twentieth century also saw, within Roman Catholicism, forms of Christian Existentialism and new adaptations of the system of Thomas Aquinas. Gabriel Marcel (1889–1973), like Heidegger, was concerned with the nature of Being as it appears to human being, but he tried to show that there are experiences of love, joy, hope and faith which, as understood from within, give us reason to believe in an inexhaustible Presence, which is God. Jacques Maritain (1882–1973) developed a form of Thomism that retained the natural law, but regarded ethical judgment as not purely cognitive but guided by pre-conceptual affective inclinations. He gave more place to history than traditional Thomism did, allowing for development in the human knowledge of natural law, and he defended democracy as the appropriate way for human persons to attain freedom and dignity. The notion of the value of the person and the capacities given to persons by their creator was at the center of the ‘personalism’ of Pope John Paul II's The Acting Person (1979), influenced by Max Scheler (1874–1928).

Natural law theory has been taken up and modified more recently by three philosophers who write in a style closer to the analytic tradition, John Finnis, Alastair MacIntyre and Jean Porter. Finnis holds that our knowledge of the fundamental moral truths is self-evident, and so is not deduced from human nature. His Natural Law and Natural Rights (1980) was a landmark in integrating the modern vocabulary and grammar of rights into the tradition of Natural Law. MacIntyre, who has been on a long journey back from Marxism to Thomism, holds that we can know what kind of life we ought to live on the basis of knowing our natural end, which he now identifies in theological terms. In After Virtue (1981) he is still influenced by a Hegelian historicism, and holds that the only way to settle rival knowledge claims is to see how successfully each can account for the shape taken by its rivals. A different account of natural law is found in Porter, who in Nature as Reason (2005) retains the view that our final motivation is our own happiness and perfection, but rejects the view that we can deduce absolute action-guiding moral principles from human nature. Another contemporary school is virtue ethics, for example Philippa Foot in Natural Goodness (2001) and Rosalind Hursthouse in On Virtue Ethics (1999). They are not Roman Catholic but they are strongly influenced by Aristotle and Aquinas. They emphasize the notion of virtue which belongs to human nature just as bees have stings. Hursthouse ends her book by saying that we have to hold onto the hope that we can live together, not at each other's expense, a hope which she says used to be called belief in (God's) Providence (On Virtue Ethics, 265). One final contribution to be mentioned here is Linda Zagzebski's Divine Motivation Theory (2004) which proposes, as an alternative to divine command theory, that we can understand all moral normatively in terms of the notion of a good emotion, and that God's emotions are the best exemplar. We will return to the rebirth of divine command theory at the end of this entry.

Michel Foucault (1926–84) followed Nietzsche in aspiring to uncover the ‘genealogy’ of various contemporary forms of thought and practice (he was concerned, for example, with our treatment of sexuality and mental illness), and how relations of power and domination have produced ‘discourses of truth’ (“Truth and Power,” Power, 131). In his later work he described four different aspects of the ‘practice of the self’: We select the desires, acts, and thoughts that we attend to morally, we recognize ourselves as morally bound by some particular ground, e.g., divine commands, or rationality, or human nature, we transform ourselves into ethical subjects by some set of techniques, e.g., meditation or mortification or consciousness-raising, and finally, we propose a ‘telos’ or goal, the way of life or mode of being that the subject is aiming at, e.g., self-mastery, tranquility or purification. Foucault criticized Christian conventions that tend to take morality as a juristic and often universal code of laws, and to ignore the creative practice of self-making. Even if Christian and post-Christian moralists turn their attention to self-expression, he thought they tend to focus on the confession of truth about oneself, a mode of expression which is historically linked to the church and the modern psycho-sciences. Foucault preferred stressing our freedom to form ourselves as ethical subjects, and develop ‘a new form of right’ and a ‘non-disciplinary form of power’ (“Disciplinary Power and Subjection,” Power, 242). He did not, however, tell us much more about what these new forms would be like.

Jürgen Habermas (1929-) proposed a ‘communicative ethics’ that develops the Kantian element in Marxism (The Theory of Communicative Action, Vols. I and II). By analyzing the structure of communication (using speech-act theory developed in analytic philosophy) he lays out a procedure that will rationally justify norms, though he does not claim to know what norms a society will adopt by using this procedure. The two ideas behind this procedure are that norms are valid if they receive the consent of all the affected parties in unconstrained practical communication, and if the consequences of the general observance of the norms (in terms of how each person's interests are affected) are acceptable to all. Habermas thinks he fulfills in this way Hegel's aim of reconciling the individual and society, because the communication process extends individuals beyond their private perspectives in the process of reaching agreement. Religious convictions need to be left behind when entering the public square, on this scheme, because they are not communicable in the way the procedure requires. In recent work he has modified this position, by recognizing that certain religious forms require their adherents to speak in an explicitly religious way when advancing their prescriptions for public life, and it is discriminatory to try to prevent their doing so.

Within contemporary Jewish ethics mention should be made of Martin Buber (1878–1965) and Emmanuel Levinas (1906–95). Buber's form of existentialism emphasized the I-You relationship, which exists not only between human beings but (out of that) between human beings and God. When we reject I-You relationship, we return to I-It relations, governed by our impositions of our own conceptualizations on objects. Buber said these two relations are exhaustive. ‘There is no I as such but only the I of the basic word I-You and the I of the basic word I-It.’ (I and Thou, 54). Levinas studied under Husserl, and knew Heidegger, whose work he first embraced and then rejected. His focus, like Buber's, was on the ‘ethics of the Other’, and he held that the face of the Other makes a demand on us even before we recognize our freedom to accept it or reject it. To meet the Other is to have the idea of Infinity (Ethics and Infinity, 90–1).

We are sometimes said to live now in a ‘post-modern’ age. This term is problematic in various ways. As used within architectural theory in the 1960's and 1970's it had a relatively clear sense. There was a recognizable style that either borrowed bits and pieces from styles of the past, or mocked the very idea (in modernist architecture) of essential functionality. In philosophy, the term is less clearly definable. It combines a distaste for ‘meta-narratives’ and a rejection of any form of foundationalism. The effect on philosophical thinking about the relation between morality and religion is two-fold. On the one hand, the modernist rejection of religion on the basis of a foundationalist empiricism is itself rejected. This makes the current climate more hospitable to religious language than it was for most of the twentieth century. But on the other hand, the distaste for over-arching theory means that religious meta-narratives are suspect to the same degree as any other, and the hospitality is more likely to be towards bits and pieces of traditional theology than to any theological system as a whole. Habermas uses the term ‘post-secular age’ to describe our current condition, in which the secularization hypothesis (that religion was destined to wither away under the impact of science and education) has apparently failed.

Mention should be made of some movements that are not philosophical in a professional sense, but are important in understanding the relation between morality and religion. Liberation theology, of which a leading spokesman from Latin America is Gustavo Gutiérrez (1928-), has attempted to reconcile the Christian gospel with a commitment (influenced by Marxist categories) to revolution to relieve the condition of the oppressed. The civil rights movement (drawing heavily on Exodus), feminist ethics, animal liberation, environmental ethics, and the gay rights and children's rights movements have shown special sensitivity to the moral status of some particular oppressed class. The leadership of some of these movements has been religiously committed, while the leadership of others has not. At the same time, the notion of human rights, or justified claims by every human being, has grown in global reach, partly through the various instrumentalities of the United Nations. There has, however, been less consensus on the question of how to justify human rights. There are theological justifications, deriving from the image of God in every human being, or the command to love the neighbor, or the covenant between God and humanity (see Wolterstorff, Justice: Rights and Wrongs, chapter 16). Whether there is a non-theological justification is not yet clear. Finally, there has also been a burst of activity in professional ethics, such as medical ethics, engineering ethics, and business ethics. This has not been associated with any one school of philosophy rather than another. The connection of religion with these developments has been variable. In some cases (e.g., medical ethics) the initial impetus for the new sub-discipline was strongly influenced by theology, and in other cases not.

The origin of analytic philosophy can be associated with G.E. Moore. His Principia Ethica (1903) can be regarded as the first major ethical document of the school. He was strongly influenced by Sidgwick at Cambridge, but rejected Sidgwick's negative views about intuitionism. He thought that intrinsic goodness was a real property of things, even though (like the number two) it does not exist in time and is not the object of sense experience. He explicitly aligned himself here with Plato and against the class of empiricist philosophers, ‘to which most Englishmen have belonged’ (Principia Ethica, 162). His predecessors, Moore thought, had almost all committed the error, which he called ‘the naturalistic fallacy,’ of trying to define this value property by identifying it with a non-evaluative property. For example, they proposed that goodness is pleasure, or what produces pleasure. But whatever non-evaluative property we try to say goodness is identical to, we will find that it remains an open question whether that property is in fact good. For example, it makes sense to ask whether pleasure or the production of pleasure is good. This is true also if we propose a supernatural property to identify with goodness, for example the property of being commanded by God. It still makes sense to ask whether what God commands is good. This question cannot be the same as the question ‘Is what God commands what God commands?’ which is not still an open question. Moore thought that if these questions are different, then the two properties, goodness and being commanded by God, cannot be the same, and to say (by way of a definition) that they are the same is to commit the fallacy. Intrinsic goodness, Moore said, is a simple non-natural property (i.e., neither natural nor supernatural) and indefinable. He thought we had a special form of cognition that he called ‘intuition,’ which gives us access to such properties. By this he meant that the access was not based on inference or argument, but was self-evident (though we could still get it wrong, just as we can with sense-perception). He thought the way to determine what things had positive value intrinsically was to consider what things were such that, if they existed by themselves in isolation, we would yet judge their existence to be good.

At Cambridge Moore was a colleague of Bertrand Russell (1872–1970) and Ludwig Wittgenstein (1889–1951). Russell was not primarily a moral philosopher, but he expressed radically different views at different times about ethics. In 1910 he agreed with Moore that goodness (like roundness) is a quality that belongs to objects independently of our opinions, and that when two people differ about whether a thing is good, only one of them can be right. By 1922 he was holding an error theory (like that of John Mackie, 1917–81) that although we mean by ‘good’ an objective property in this way, there is in fact no such thing, and hence all our value judgments are strictly speaking false (“The Element of Ethics,” Philosophical Essays). Then by 1935 he had dropped also the claim about meaning, holding that value judgments are expressions of desire or wish, and not assertions at all. Wittgenstein's views on ethics are enigmatic and subject to wildly different interpretations. In the Tractatus (which is about logic) he says at the end, ‘It is clear that ethics cannot be put into words. Ethics is transcendental. (Ethics and aesthetics are one and the same.)’ (Tractatus, 6.421). Perhaps he means that the world we occupy is good or bad (and happy or unhappy) as a whole, and not piece-by-piece. Wittgenstein (like Nietzsche) was strongly influenced by Schopenhauer's notion of will, and by his disdain for ethical theories that purport to be able to tell one what to do and what not to do. The Tractatus was taken up by the Logical Positivists, though Wittgenstein himself was never a Logical Positivist. The Logical Positivists held a ‘verificationist’ theory of meaning, that assertions can be meaningful only if they can in principle be verified by sense experience or if they are tautologies (for example, ‘All bachelors are unmarried men.’) This seems to leave ethical statements (and statements about God) meaningless, and indeed that was the deliberately provocative position taken by A.J. Ayer (1910–89). Ayer accepted Moore's arguments about the naturalistic fallacy, and since Moore's talk of ‘non-natural properties’ seemed to Ayer just nonsense, he was led to emphasize and analyze further the non-cognitive ingredient in evaluation which Moore had identified. Suppose I say to a cannibal, ‘You acted wrongly in eating your prisoner.’ Ayer thought I am not stating anything more than if I had simply said, ‘You ate your prisoner.’ I am, rather, evincing my moral disapproval of it. It is as if I had said, ‘You ate your prisoner’ in a peculiar tone of horror, or written it with the addition of some special exclamation marks (Language, Truth and Logic, 107–8).

The emotivist theory of ethics had its most articulate treatment in Ethics and Language by Charles Stevenson (1908–79). Stevenson was a positivist, but also the heir of John Dewey (1859–1952) and the American pragmatist tradition. Dewey had rejected the idea of fixed ends for human beings, and stressed that moral deliberation occurs in the context of competition within a person between different ends, none of which can be assumed permanent. He criticized theories that tried to derive moral principles from self-certifying reason, or intuition, or cosmic forms, or divine commands, both because he thought there are no self-certifying faculties or self-evident norms, and because the alleged derivation disguises the actual function of the principles as devices for social action. Stevenson applied this emphasis to the competition between people with different ends, and stressed the role of moral language as a social instrument for persuasion (Ethics and Language, Ch. 5). On his account, normative judgments express attitudes and invite others to share these attitudes, but they are not strictly speaking true or false.

Wittgenstein did not publish any book after the Tractatus, but he wrote and taught; and after his death Philosophical Investigations was published in 1953. The later thought of Wittgenstein bears a similar relation to the Tractatus as Heidegger bears to Husserl. In both cases the quest for a kind of scientific certainty was replaced by the recognition that science is itself just one language, and not in many cases prior by right. The later Wittgenstein employed the notion of different ‘forms of life’ in which different ‘language games’ including those of religion are at home (Philosophical Investigation, §7, 19, 373). In Oxford there was a parallel though distinct development centering round the work of John Austin (1911–60). Austin did not suppose that ordinary language was infallible, but he did think that it preserved a great deal of wisdom that had passed the test of centuries of experience, and that traditional philosophical discussion had ignored this primary material. In How to do Things with Words (published posthumously) Austin labeled ‘the descriptive fallacy’ the mistake of thinking that all language is used to perform the act of describing or reporting, and he attributed the discovery of this fallacy to Kant (How to do Things with Words, 3).

R.M. Hare (1919–2002) took up the diagnosis of this fallacy, and proposed a ‘universal prescriptivism’ which attributed three characteristics to the language of morality. First, it is prescriptive, which is to say that moral judgments express the will in a way analogous to commands. This preserves the emotivist insight that moral judgment is different from assertion, but does not deny the role of rationality in such judgment. Second, moral judgment is universalizable. This is similar to the formula of Kant's categorical imperative that requires that we be able to will the maxims of our actions as universal laws. Third, moral judgment is overriding. This means that moral prescriptions legitimately take precedence over any other normative prescriptions. In Moral Thinking (1981) Hare claimed to demonstrate that utilitarianism followed from these three features of morality, though he excluded ideals (in the sense of preferences for how the world should be independently of the agent's concurrent desires or experience) from the scope of this argument. God enters in two ways into this picture. First, Hare proposed a figure he calls ‘the archangel’ who is the model for fully critical (as opposed to intuitive) moral thinking, having full access to all the relevant information and complete impartiality between the affected parties. Hare acknowledge that since archangels (e.g., Lucifer) are not reliably impartial in this way, it is really God who is the model. Second, we have to be able to believe (as Kant argued) that the universe sustains morality in the sense that it is worthwhile trying to be morally good. Hare thought that this requires something like a belief (he called it a ‘blik’) in the operation of Providence (“The Simple Believer,” Essays on Religion and Education, appendix, 37–9).

The most important opponent of utilitarianism in the twentieth century was John Rawls (1921–2005). In his Theory of Justice (1971) he gave, like Hare, an account of ethics heavily indebted to Kant. But he insisted that utilitarianism does not capture the Kantian insight that each person is an end in himself or herself, because it ‘does not take seriously the distinction between persons’ (Theory of Justice, 22). He constructed the thought experiment of the ‘Original Position’ in which individuals imagine themselves not knowing what role in society they are going to play or what endowments of talent or material wealth they possess, and agree together on what principles of justice they will accept. Rawls thought it important that substantive conceptions of the good life were left behind in moving to the Original Position, because he was attempting to provide an account of justice that people with competing visions of the good could agree to in a pluralist society. Like early Habermas he included religions under this prohibition. In Political Liberalism (1993) he conceded that the procedure of the Original Position is itself ideologically constrained, and he moved to the idea of an overlapping consensus: Kantians can accept the idea of justice as fairness (which the procedure describes) because it realizes autonomy, utilitarians because it promotes overall utility, Christians because it is part of divine law, etc. But even here Rawls wanted to insist that adherents of the competing visions of the good leave their particular conceptions behind in public discourse and justify the policies they endorse on grounds that are publicly accessible. He described this as the citizen's duty of civility (Political Liberalism, iv).

The section of this entry on the continental school discussed briefly the topic of postmodernism. Within analytic philosophy the term is less prevalent. But both schools live in the same increasingly global cultural context. In this context we can reflect on the two main disqualifiers of the project of relating morality intimately to religion that seemed to emerge in the nineteenth and twentieth centuries. The first disqualifier was the prestige of natural science, and the attempt to make it foundational for all human knowledge. The various empiricist, verificationist, and reductionist forms of foundationalism have not yet succeeded, and even within modern philosophy there has been a continuous resistance to them. This is not to say they will not succeed in the future (for example we may discover a foundation for ethics in the theory of evolution), but the confidence in their future success has waned. Moreover, the secularization hypothesis seems to have been false, as mentioned earlier. Certainly parts of Western Europe are less attached to traditional institutional forms of religion. But taking the world as a whole, religion seems to be increasing in influence rather than declining as the world's educational standards improve. The second main disqualifier was the liberal idea (present in the narrative of this entry from the time of the religious wars in Europe) that we need a moral discourse based on reason and not religion in order to avoid the hatred and bloodshed that religion seems to bring with it. Here the response to Rawls has been telling. It seems false that we can respect persons and at the same time tell them to leave their fundamental commitments behind in public discourse, and it seems false also that some purely rational but still action-guiding component can be separated off from these competing substantive conceptions of the good (see Wolterstorff, “An Engagement with Rorty”.) It is true that religious commitment can produce the deliberate targeting of civilians in a skyscraper. But the history of the twentieth century suggests that non-religious totalitarian regimes have at least as much blood on their hands. Perhaps the truth is, as Kant saw, that people under the Evil Maxim will use any available ideology for their purposes. Progress towards civility is more likely if Muslims, Christians, Jews, (and Buddhists and Hindus) are encouraged to enter ‘the public square’ with their commitments explicit, and see how much common ethical ground there in fact is. This writer has done some of this discussion, and found the common ground surprisingly extensive, though sometime common language disguises significant differences. Progress seems more likely in this way than by trying to construct a neutral philosophical ground that very few people actually accept.

One recent development in analytic ethical theory has been a revival of divine command theory parallel to the revival of natural law theory that I have already described. A pioneer in this revival was Philip Quinn's Divine Command and Moral Requirements (1978). He defended the theory against the usual objections (one, deriving from Plato's Euthyprho, that it makes morality arbitrary, and the second, deriving from a misunderstanding of Kant, that it is inconsistent with human autonomy), and proposed that we understand the relation between God and moral rightness causally, rather than analyzing the terms of moral obligation as meaning ‘commanded by God’. Though we could stipulate such a definition, it would make it obscure how theists and non-theists could have genuine moral discussion, as they certainly seem to do. Robert M. Adams, in a series of articles and then in Finite and Infinite Goods (1999), first separates off the good (which he analyzes Platonically in terms of imitating the ultimate good, which is God) and the right. He then defends a divine command theory of the right by arguing that obligation is always obligation to someone, and God is the most appropriate person, given human limitations. John Hare, In God and Morality (2007) and Divine Command (2015), defends a version of the theory that derives from God's sovereignty and defends the theory against the objection that obedience to divine command itself requires justification. He also compares Christian, Jewish and Muslim accounts of divine command. Thomas L. Carson's Value and the Good Life (2000) argues that normative theory needs to be based on an account of rationality, and then proposes that a divine-preference account of rationality is superior to all the available alternatives. An objection to divine command theory is mounted by Mark Murphy's An Essay on Divine Authority (2002) and God and Moral Law (2012) on the grounds that divine command only has authority over those persons that have submitted themselves to divine authority, but moral obligation has authority more broadly. William Wainwright's Religion and Morality defends the claim that divine command theory provides a more convincing account of moral obligation than any virtue-based theory, including Zagzebski's divine motivation theory, discussed earlier. Finally, C. Stephen Evans, in Kierkegaard's Ethics of Love: Divine Commands and Moral Obligations (2004) and God and Moral Obligation(2013) articulates both in Kierkegaard and in its own right a divine command theory that is argued to be superior to all the main alternative non-theist accounts of the nature and basis of moral obligation.

To conclude this entry, the revival of interest in divine command theory, when combined with the revival of natural law theory I already discussed, shows evidence that the attempt to connect morality closely to religion is undergoing a robust recovery within professional philosophy.


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