Notes to Modern Confucianism

1. This is not at all to say that Tang rejects the existence of matter, as Metzger (2005: 193) implies. Tang was unequivocal that he is not an idealist in that sense (TJCW 9: 137).

2. The word here is also xin 心 but he clearly means the physical organ specifically.

3. I specifically avoid translating this term as “natural feelings” because that could easily be taken for instincts, which is not at all what Tang meant.

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David Elstein <>

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