Epistemic Foundations of Game Theory
Foundational work in game theory aims at making explicit the assumptions that underlie the basic concepts of the discipline. Noncooperative game theory is the study of individual, rational decision making in situations of strategic interaction. This entry presents the epistemic foundations of noncooperative game theory (this area of research is called epistemic game theory).
Epistemic game theory views rational decision making in games as something not essentially different from rational decision making under uncertainty. As in Decision Theory (Peterson 2009), to choose rationally in a game is to select the “best” action in light of one’s beliefs or information. In a decision problem, the decision maker’s beliefs are about a passive state of nature, the state of which determines the consequences of her actions. In a game, the consequences of one’s decision depend on the choices of the other agents involved in the situation (and possibly the state of nature). Recognizing this—i.e., that one is interacting with other agents who try to choose the best course of action in the light of their own beliefs—brings higherorder information into the picture. The players’ beliefs are no longer about a passive or external environment. They concern the choices and the information of the other players. What one expects of one’s opponents depends on what one thinks the others expect from her, and what the others expect from a given player depends on what they think her expectations about them are.
This entry provides an overview of the issues that arise when one takes this broadly decisiontheoretic view on rational decision making in games. After some general comments about information in games, we present the formal tools developed in epistemic game theory and epistemic logic that have been used to understand the role of higherorder information in interactive decision making. We then show how these tools can be used to characterize known “solution concepts” of games in terms of rational decision making in specific informational contexts. Along the way, we highlight a number of philosophical issues that arise in this area.
 1. The Epistemic View of Games
 2. Game Models
 3. Choice Rules, or Choosing Optimally
 4. Fundamentals
 5. Developments
 6. A Paradox of SelfReference in Game Models
 7. Concluding Remarks
 Bibliography
 Academic Tools
 Other Internet Resources
 Related Entries
1. The Epistemic View of Games
1.1 Classical Game Theory
A game refers to any interactive situation involving a group of selfinterested agents, or players. The defining feature of a game is that the players are engaged in an “interdependent decision problem” (Schelling 1960). Classically, the mathematical description of a game includes following components:
The players. In this entry, we only consider games with a finite set of players. We use \(\Agt\) to denote the set of players in a game, and \(i, j,\ldots\) to denote its elements.
The feasible options (typically called actions or strategies) for each player. Again, we only consider games with finitely many feasible options for each player.
The players’ preferences over possible outcome. Here we represent them as von NeumannMorgenstern utility functions \(u_i\) assigning realvalued utilities to each outcome of the game.
A game can have many other structural properties. It can be represented as a singleshot or multistage decision problem, or it can include simultaneous or stochastic moves. We start with games in strategic form without stochastic moves, and will introduce more sophisticated games as we go along in the entry. In a strategic game, each player \(i\) can choose from a (finite) set \(S_i\) of options, also called actions or strategies. The combination of all the players’ choices, denoted \({\mathbf{s}}\), is called a strategy profile, or outcome of the game. We write \({\mathbf{s}}_i\) for \(i\)’s component in \({\mathbf{s}}\), and \({\mathbf{s}}_{i}\) for the profile of strategies for all agents other than \(i\). Finally, we write \(\Pi_{i \in \Agt} S_i\) for the set of all strategy profiles of a given game. Putting everything together, a strategic game is a tuple \(\langle \A, \{S_i, u_i\}_{i\in\A}\rangle\) where \(\A\) is a finite set of players, for each \(i\in\A\), \(S_i\) is a finite set of actions and \(u_i:\Pi_{i\in\A} S_i\rightarrow\mathbb{R}\) is player \(i\)’s utility function.
The game in Figure 1 is an example of a game in strategic form. There are two players, Ann and Bob, and each has to choose between two options: \(\Agt = \{Ann, Bob\}\), \(S_{Ann} = \{u, d\}\) and \(S_{Bob} = \{l, r\}\). The value of \(u_{Ann}\) and \(u_{Bob}\), representing their respective preferences over the possible outcomes of the game, are displayed in the cell of the matrix. If Bob chooses \(l\), for instance, Ann prefers the outcome she would get by choosing \(u\) to the one she would get by choosing \(d\), but this preference is reversed in the case Bob chooses \(r\). This game is called a “pure coordination game” in the literature because the players have a clear interest in coordinating their choices—i.e., on \((u, l)\) or \((d, r)\)—but they are indifferent about which way they coordinate their choices.
Bob  
Ann 

Figure 1: A coordination game
In a game, no single player has total control over which outcome will be realized at the end of the interaction. This depends on the decisions of all players. Such abstract models of interdependent decisions are capable of representing a whole array of social situations, from strictly competitive to cooperative ones. See Ross (2010) for more details about classical game theory and key references.
The central analytic tool of classical game theory are solution concepts. They provide a topdown perspective specifying which outcomes of a game are deemed “rational”. This can be given both a prescriptive or a predictive reading. Nash equilibrium is one of the most wellknown solution concepts, but we will encounter others below. In the game above, for instance, there are two Nash equilibria in socalled “pure strategies.”^{[1]} These are the two coordination profiles: \((u, l)\) and \((d, r)\).
From a prescriptive point of view, a solution concept is a set of practical recommendations—i.e., recommendations about what the players should do in a game. From a predictive point of view, solution concepts describe what the players will actually do in certain interactive situation. Consider again the pure strategy Nash equilibria in the above example. Under a prescriptive interpretation, it singles out what players should do in the game. That is, Ann and Bob should either play their component of \((u, l)\) or \((d, r)\). Under the predictive interpretation, these profiles are the ones that one would expect to observe in a actual play of that game.
This solutionconceptdriven perspective on games faces many foundational difficulties, which we do not survey here. The interested reader can consult Ross (2010), Bruin (2010), and Kadane & Larkey (1983) for a discussion.
1.2 Epistemic Game Theory
Epistemic game theory is a broad area of research encompassing a number of different mathematical frameworks that are used to analyze games. The details of the frameworks are different, but they do share a common perspective. In this Section, we discuss two key features of this common perspective.
 (1) Epistemic game theory takes a broadly Bayesian perspective on decisionmaking in strategic situations.
This point of view is nicely explained by Robert Stalnaker:
There is no special concept of rationality for decision making in a situation where the outcomes depend on the actions of more than one agent. The acts of other agents are, like chance events, natural disasters and acts of God, just facts about an uncertain world that agents have beliefs and degrees of belief about. The utilities of other agents are relevant to an agent only as information that, together with beliefs about the rationality of those agents, helps to predict their actions. (Stalnaker 1996: 136)
In other words, epistemic game theory can be seen as an attempt to bring back the theory of decision making in games to its decisiontheoretic roots.
In decision theory, the decisionmaking units are individuals with preferences over the possible consequences of their actions. Since the consequence of a given action depend on the state of the environment, the decisionmaker’s beliefs about the state of the environment are crucial to assess the rationality of a particular decision. So, the formal description of a decision problem includes the possible outcomes and states of the environment, the decision maker’s preferences over these outcome, and a description of the decision maker’s beliefs about the state of nature (i.e., the decision maker’s doxastic state). A decisiontheoretic choice rule can be used to make recommendations to the decision maker about what she should choose (or to predict what the decisionmaker will choose). A standard example of a choice rule is maximization of (subjective) expected utility, underlying the Bayesian view of rationality. It presupposes that the decision maker’s preferences and beliefs can be represented by numerical utilities and probabilities, respectively.^{[2]} (We postpone the formal representation of this, and the other choice rules such as weak and strict dominance, until we have presented the formal models of beliefs in games in Section 2.)
From an epistemic point of view, the classical ingredients of a game (players, actions, outcomes, and preferences) are thus not enough to formulate recommendations or predictions about how the players should or will choose. One needs to specify the (interactive) decision problem the players are in, i.e., also the beliefs players have about each other’s possible actions (and beliefs). In a terminology that is becoming increasingly popular in epistemic game theory, games are played in specific contexts (Friedenberg & Meier 2010, Other Internet Resources), in which the players have specific knowledge and/or beliefs about each other. The recommendations and/or predictions that are appropriate for one context may not transfer to another, even if the underlying situation may correspond to precisely the same strategic game.
 (2) In epistemic game theory, uncertainty about opponents’ strategies takes centerstage.
There are various types of information that a player has access to in a game situation. For instance, a player may have
imperfect information about the play of the game (which moves have been played?);
incomplete information about the structure of the game (what are the actions/payoffs?);
strategic information (what will the other players do?); or
higherorder information (what are the other players thinking?).
While all types of uncertainty may play a role in an epistemic analysis of a game, a distinguishing feature of epistemic game theory is an insistence that rational decisions are assessed in terms of the players’ preferences and beliefs about what their opponents are going to do. Again we turn to Stalnaker to summarize this point of view:
…There are no special rules of rationality telling one what to do in the absence of degrees of belief [about the opponents’ choices], except this: decide what you believe, and then maximize expected utility. (Stalnaker 1996: 136)
The four types of uncertainty in games introduced above are conceptually important, but not necessarily exhaustive nor mutually exclusive. John Harsanyi, for instance, argued that all uncertainty about the structure of the game, that is all possible incompleteness in information, can be reduced to uncertainty about the payoffs (Harsanyi 1967–68). (This was later formalized and proved by Stuart and Hu 2002). In a similar vein, Kadane & Larkey (1982) argue that only strategic uncertainty is relevant for the assessment of decision in game situations. Contemporary epistemic game theory takes the view that, although it may ultimately be reducible to strategic uncertainty, making higherorder uncertainty explicit can clarify a great deal of what interactive or strategic rationality means.
The crucial difference from the classical “solutionconcept” analysis of a game is that epistemic game theory takes a bottomup perspective. Once the context of the game is specified, the rational outcomes are derived, given assumptions about how the players are making their choices and what they know and believe about how the others are choosing. In the remainder of this section, we briefly discuss some general issues that arise from taking an epistemic perspective on games. We postpone discussion of higherorder and strategic uncertainty until Sections 3, 4 and 5.
1.3 Stages of Decision Making
It is standard in the game theory literature to distinguish three stages of the decision making process: ex ante, ex interim and ex post. At one extreme is the ex ante stage where no decision has been made yet. The other extreme is the ex post stage where the choices of all players are openly disclosed. In between these two extremes is the ex interim stage where the players have made their decisions, but they are still uninformed about the decisions and intentions of the other players.
These distinctions are not intended to be sharp. Rather, they describe various stages of information disclosure during the decisionmaking process. At the exante stage, little is known except the structure of the game, who is taking part, and possibly (but not necessarily) some aspect of the agents’ character. At the expost stage the game is basically over: all player have made their decision and these are now irrevocably out in the open. This does not mean that all uncertainty is removed as an agent may remain uncertain about what exactly the others were expecting of her. In between these two extreme stages lies a whole gradation of states of information disclosure that we loosely refer to as “the” exinterim stage. Common to these stages is the fact that the agents have made a decision, although not necessarily an irrevocable one.
In this entry, we focus on the ex interim stage of decision making. This is in line with much of the literature on the epistemic foundations of game theory as it allows for a straightforward assessment of the agents’ rationality given their expectations about how their opponents will choose. Focusing on the ex interim stage does raise some interesting questions about possible correlations between a player’s strategy choice, what Stalnaker (1999) calls “active knowledge”, and her information about the choices of others, her “passive knowledge” (idem). The question of how a player should react, that is eventually revise her decision, upon learning that she did not choose “rationally” is an interesting and important one, but we do not discuss it in the entry. Note that this question is different from the one of how agents should revise their beliefs upon learning that others did not choose rationally. This second question is very relevant in games in which players choose sequentially, and will be addressed in Section 4.2.3.
1.4 Incomplete Information
A natural question to ask about any mathematical model of a game situation is how does the analysis change if the players are uncertain about some of the parameters of the model? This motivated Harsanyi’s fundamental work introducing the notion of a gametheoretic type and defining a Bayesian game in Harsanyi 1967–68. Using these ideas, an extensive literature has developed that analyzes games in which players are uncertain about some aspect of the game. (Consult LeytonBrown & Shoham (2008: ch. 7) for a concise summary of the current stateofaffairs and pointers to the relevant literature.) One can naturally wonder about the precise relationship between this literature and the literature we survey in this entry on the epistemic foundations of game theory. Indeed, the foundational literature we discuss here largely focuses on Harsanyi’s approach to modeling higherorder beliefs (which we discuss in Section 2.3).
There are two crucial differences between the literature on Bayesian games and the literature we discuss in this entry (cf. the discussion in Brandenburger 2010: sec. 4 and 5).
In a Bayesian game, players are uncertain about the payoffs of the game, what other players believe are the correct payoffs, what other players believe that the other players believe about the payoffs, and so on, and this is the only source of uncertainty. That is, the players’ (higherorder) beliefs about the payoffs in a game completely determine the (higherorder) beliefs about the other aspects of the game. In particular, if a player comes to know the payoffs of the other players, then that player is certain (and correct) about the possible (rational) choices of the other players.^{[3]}
It is assumed that all players choose optimally given their information. That is, all players choose a strategy that maximizes their expected utility given their beliefs about the game, beliefs about what other players believe about the game, and so on. This means, in particular, that players do not entertain the possibility that their opponents may choose “irrationally.”
Note that these assumptions are not inherent in the formalism that Harsanyi used to represent the players’ beliefs in a game of incomplete information. Rather, they are better described as conventions followed by Harsanyi and subsequent researchers studying Bayesian games.
1.5 Imperfect Information and Perfect Recall
In a game with imperfect information (see Ross 2010 for a discussion), the players may not be perfectly informed about the moves of their opponents or the outcome of chance moves by nature. Games with imperfect information can be pictured as follows:
Figure 2
The interpretation is that the decision made at the first node (\(d_0\)) is forgotten, and so the decision maker is uncertain about whether she is at node \(d_1\) or \(d_2\). See Osborne (2003: ch. 9 & 10) for the general theory of games with imperfect information. In this section, we briefly discuss a foundational issue that arises in games with imperfect information.
Kuhn (1953) introduced the distinction between perfect and imperfect recall in games with imperfect information. Roughly, players have perfect recall provided they remember all of their own past moves (see Bonanno 2004; Kaneko & Kline 1995 for general discussions of the perfect recall assumption). It is standard in the game theory literature to assume that all players have perfect recall (i.e., they may be uncertain about previous choices of their opponents or nature, but they do remember their own moves).
As we noted in Section 1.3, there are different stages to the decision making process. Differences between these stages become even more pronounced in extensive games in which there is a temporal dimension to the game. There are two ways to think about the decision making process in an extensive game (with imperfect information). The first is to focus on the initial “planning stage”. That is, initially, the players settle on a strategy specifying the (possibly random) move they will make at each of their choice nodes (this is the players’ global strategy). Then, the players start making their respective moves (following the strategies which they have committed to without reconsidering their options at each choice node). Alternatively, we can assume that the players make “local judgements” at each of their choice nodes, always choosing the best option given the information that is currently available to them. A wellknown theorem of Kuhn (1953) shows that if players have perfect recall, then a strategy is globally optimal if, and only if, it is locally optimal (see Brandenburger 2007 for a selfcontained presentation of this classic result). That is, both ways of thinking about the decision making process in extensive games (with imperfect information) lead to the same recommendations/predictions.
The assumption of perfect recall is crucial for Kuhn’s result. This is demonstrated by the wellknown absentminded driver’s problem of Piccione and Rubinstein (1997a). Interestingly, their example is one where a decision maker may be tempted to change his strategy after the initial planning stage, despite getting no new information. They describe the example as follows:
An individual is sitting late at night in a bar planning his midnight trip home. In order to get home he has to take the highway and get off at the second exit. Turning at the first exit leads into a disastrous area (payoff 0). Turning at the second exit yields the highest reward (payoff 4). If he continues beyond the second exit, he cannot go back and at the end of the highway he will find a motel where he can spend the night (payoff 1). The driver is absentminded and is aware of this fact. At an intersection, he cannot tell whether it is the first or the second intersection and he cannot remember how many he has passed (one can make the situation more realistic by referring to the 17th intersection). While sitting at the bar, all he can do is to decide whether or not to exit at an intersection. (Piccione & Rubinstein 1997a: 7)
The decision tree for the absentminded driver is pictured below:
Figure 3
This problem is interesting since it demonstrates that there is a conflict between what the decision maker commits to do while planning at the bar and what he thinks is best at the first intersection:
Planning stage: While planning his trip home at the bar, the decision maker is faced with a choice between “Continue; Continue” and “Exit”. Since he cannot distinguish between the two intersections, he cannot plan to “Exit” at the second intersection (he must plan the same behavior at both \(X\) and \(Y\)). Since “Exit” will lead to the worst outcome (with a payoff of 0), the optimal strategy is “Continue; Continue” with a guaranteed payoff of 1.
Action stage: When arriving at an intersection, the decision maker is faced with a local choice of either “Exit” or “Continue” (possibly followed by another decision). Now the decision maker knows that since he committed to the plan of choosing “Continue” at each intersection, it is possible that he is at the second intersection. Indeed, the decision maker concludes that he is at the first intersection with probability 1/2. But then, his expected payoff for “Exit” is 2, which is greater than the payoff guaranteed by following the strategy he previously committed to. Thus, he chooses to “Exit”.
This problem has been discussed by a number of different researchers.^{[4]} It is beyond the scope of this article to discuss the intricacies of the different analyses. An entire issue of Games and Economic Behavior (Volume 20, 1997) was devoted to the analysis of this problem. For a representative sampling of the approaches to this problem, see Kline (2002); Aumann, Hart, & Perry (1997); Board (2003); Halpern (1997); Piccione & Rubinstein (1997b).
1.6 Mixed Strategies
Mixed strategies play an important role in many gametheoretic analyses. Let \(\Delta(X)\) denote the set of probability measures over the finite^{[5]} set \(X\). A mixed strategy for player \(i\), is an element \(m_i\in \Delta(S_i)\). If \(m_i\in\Delta(S_i)\) assigns probability 1 to an element \(s_i\in S_i\), then \(m_i\) is called a pure strategy (in such a case, I write \(s_i\) for \(m_i\)). Mixed strategies are incorporated into a gametheoretic analysis as follows. Suppose that \(G=\langle N, \{S_i, u_i\}_{i\in N}\rangle\) is a finite strategic game. The mixed extension of \(G\) is the strategic game in which the strategies for player \(i\) are the mixed strategies in \(G\) (i.e., \(\Delta(S_i)\)) and the utility for player \(i\) (denoted \(U_i\)) of the joint mixed strategy \(m\in \Pi_{i\in N} \Delta(S_i)\) is calculated in the obvious way (let \(m(s)=m_1(s_1)\cdot m_2(s_2)\cdots m_n(s_n)\) for \(s\in \Pi_{i\in N} S_i\)):
\[U_i(m)=\sum_{s\in\Pi_{i\in N}S_i} m(s)\cdot u_i(s)\]Thus, the solution space of a mixed extension of the game \(G\) is the set \(\Pi_{i\in N} \Delta(S_i)\).
Despite their prominence in game theory, the interpretation of mixed strategies is controversial, as Ariel Rubinstein notes:
We are reluctant to believe that our decisions are made at random. We prefer to be able to point to a reason for each action we take. Outside of Las Vegas we do not spin roulettes. (Rubinstein 1991: 913).
In epistemic game theory, it is more natural to work with an alternative interpretation of mixed strategies: A mixed strategy for player \(i\) is a representation of the beliefs of \(i\)’s opponent(s) about what she will do. This is nicely explained in Robert Aumann’s influential paper (Aumann 1987—see, especially, Section 6 of this paper for a discussion of this interpretation of mixed strategies):
An important feature of our approach is that it does not require explicit randomization on the part of the players. Each player always chooses a definite pure strategy, with no attempt to randomize; the probabilistic nature of the strategies reflects the uncertainties of other players about his choice. (Aumann 1987: 3)
2. Game Models
A model of a game is a structure that represents the informational context of a given play of the game. The states, or possible worlds, in a game model describe a possible play of the game and the specific information that influenced the players’ choices (which may be different at each state). This includes each player’s “knowledge” of her own choice and opinions about the choices and “beliefs” of her opponents. A key challenge when constructing a model of a game is how to represent the different informational attitudes of the players. Researchers interested in the foundation of decision theory, epistemic and doxastic logic and, more recently, formal epistemology have developed many different formal models that can describe the many varieties of informational attitudes important for assessing the choice of a rational agent in a decision or gametheoretic situation.
After discussing some general issues that arise when describing the informational context of a game, we introduce the two main types of models that have been used to describe the players’ beliefs (and other informational attitudes) in a game situation: type spaces (Harsanyi 1967–68; Siniscalchi 2008) and the socalled Aumann or Kripkestructures (Aumann 1999a; Fagin, Halpern, Moses, & Vardi 1995). Although these two approaches have much in common, there are some important differences which we highlight below. A second, more fundamental, distinction found in the literature is between “quantitative” structures, representing “graded” attitudes (typically via probability distributions), and “qualitative” structures representing “all out” attitudes. Kripke structures are often associated with the former, and type spaces with the latter, but this is not a strict classification.
2.1 General Issues
2.1.1 Varieties of informational attitudes
Informational contexts of games can include various forms of attitudes, from the classical knowledge and belief to robust (Stalnaker 1994) and strong (Battigalli & Siniscalchi 2002) belief, each echoing in different notions of gametheoretical rationality. It is beyond the scope of this article to survey the details of this vast literature (cf. the next section for some discussion of this literature). Rather, we will introduce a general distinction between hard and soft attitudes, distinction mainly developed in dynamic epistemic logic (van Benthem 2011), which proves useful in understanding the various philosophical issues raised by epistemic game theory.
We call hard information, information that is veridical, fully introspective and not revisable. This notion is intended to capture what the agents are fully and correctly certain of in a given interactive situation. At the ex interim stage, for instance, the players have hard information about their own choice. They “know” which strategy they have chosen, they know that they know this, and no new incoming information could make them change their opinion on this. As this phrasing suggests, the term knowledge is often used, in absence of better terminology, to describe this very strong type of informational attitude. Epistemic logicians and game theorist are well aware of the possible discrepancies between such hard “knowledge” and our intuitive or even philosophical understanding of this notion. In the present context is it sufficient to observe that hard information shares some of the characteristics that have been attributed to knowledge in the epistemological literature, for instance truthfulness. Furthermore, hard information might come closer to what has been called “implicit knowledge” (see Section 5.3 below). In any case, it seems philosophically more constructive to keep an eye on where the purported counterintuitive properties of hard information come into play in epistemic game theory, rather than reject this notion as wrong or flawed at the upshot.
Soft information is, roughly speaking, anything that is not “hard”: it is not necessarily veridical, not necessarily fully introspective and/or highly revisable in the presence of new information. As such, it comes much closer to beliefs. Once again, philosophical carefulness is in order here. The whole range of informational attitudes that is labeled as “beliefs” indeed falls into the category of attitudes that can be described as “regarding something as true” (Schwitzgebel 2010), among which beliefs, in the philosophical sense, seem to form a proper subcategory.
2.1.2 Possible worlds models
The models introduced below describe the players’ hard and soft information in interactive situations. They differ in their representation of a state of the world, but they can all be broadly described as “possible worlds models” familiar in much of the philosophical logic literature. The starting point is a nonempty (finite or infinite) set \(S\) of states of nature describing the exogenous parameters (i.e., facts about the physical world) that do not depend on the agents’ uncertainties. Unless otherwise specified, \(S\) is the set of possible outcomes of the games, the set of all strategy profiles.^{[6]} Each player is assumed to entertain a number of possibilities, called possible worlds or simply (epistemic) states. These “possibilities” are intended to represent a possible way a game situation may evolve. So each possibility will be associated with a unique state of nature (i.e., there is a function from possible worlds to states of nature, but this function need not be 1–1 or even onto). It is crucial for the analysis of rationality in games that there may be different possible worlds associated with the same state of nature. Such possible worlds are important because they open the door to representing different state of information. Such statebased modeling naturally yields a propositional view of the agents’ informational attitudes. Agents will have beliefs/knowledge about propositions, which are also called events in the gametheory literature, and are represented as sets of possible worlds. These basic modeling choices are not uncontroversial, but such issues are not our concern in this entry.
2.2 Relational Models
We start with the models that are familiar to philosophical logicians (van Benthem 2010) and computer scientists (Fagin et al. 1995). These models were introduced to game theory by Robert Aumann (1976) in his seminal paper Agreeing to Disagree (see Vanderschraaf & Sillari 2009, Section 2.3, for a discussion of this result). First, some terminology: Given a set \(W\) of states, or possible worlds, let us call any subset \(E\subseteq W\) an event or proposition. Given events \(E\subseteq W\) and \(F\subseteq W\), we use standard settheoretic notation for intersection (\(E\cap F\), read “\(E\) and \(F\)”), union (\(E\cup F\), read “\(E\) or \(F\)”) and (relative) complement (\({E}\), read “not \(E\)”). We say that an event \(E\subseteq W\) occurs at state \(w\) if \(w\in E\). This terminology will be crucial for studying the following models.
Definition 2.1 (Epistemic Model) Suppose that \(G\) is a strategic game, \(S\) is the set of strategy profiles of \(G\), and \(\A\) is the set of players. An epistemic model based on \(S\) and \(\Agt\) is a triple \(\langle W,\{\Pi_i\}_{i\in\Agt},\sigma\rangle\), where \(W\) is a nonempty set, for each \(i\in\Agt\), \(\Pi_i\) is a partition^{[7]} over \(W\) and \(\sigma:W\rightarrow S\).
Epistemic models represent the informational context of a given game in terms of possible configurations of states of the game and the hard information that the agents have about them. The function \(\sigma\) assigns to each possible world a unique state of the game in which every ground fact is either true or false. If \(\sigma(w) = \sigma(w')\) then the two worlds \(w,w'\) will agree on all the ground facts (i.e., what actions the players will choose) but, crucially, the agents may have different information in them. So, elements of \(W\) are richer, than the elements of \(S\) (more on this below).
Given a state \(w\in W\), the cell \(\Pi_i(w)\) is called agent \(i\)’s information set. Following standard terminology, if \(\Pi_i(w)\subseteq E\), we say the agent \(i\) knows the event \(E\) at state \(w\). Given an event \(E\), the event that agent \(i\) knows \(E\) is denoted \(K_i(E)\). Formally, we define for each agent \(i\) a knowledge function assigning to every event \(E\) the event that the agent \(i\) knows \(E\):
Definition 2.2 (Knowledge Function) Let \(\M=\langle W,\{\Pi_i\}_{i\in\A},\sigma\rangle\) be an epistemic model. The knowledge function for agent \(i\) based on \(\M\) is \(K_i:\pow(W)\rightarrow\pow(W)\) with:
\[K_i(E)=\{w \mid \Pi_i(w)\subseteq E\}\]where for any set \(X\), \(\pow(X)\) is the powerset of \(X\).
Remark 2.3 It is often convenient to work with equivalence relations rather than partitions. In this case, an epistemic model based on \(S\) and \(\Agt\) can also be defined as a triple \(\langle W,\{\sim_i\}_{i\in\Agt},\sigma \rangle\) where \(W\) and \(\sigma\) are as above and for each \(i\in\Agt\), \(\sim_i\subseteq W\times W\) is reflexive, transitive and symmetric. Given such a model \(\langle W, \{\sim_i\}_{i\in\Agt},\sigma\rangle\), we write
\[[w]_i=\{v\in W \mid w\sim_i v\}\]for the equivalence class of \(w\). Since there is a 1–1 correspondence between equivalence relations and partitions,^{[8]} we will abuse notation and use \(\sim_i\) and \(\Pi_i\) interchangeably.
Applying the above remark, an alternative definition of \(K_i(E)\) is that \(E\) is true in all the states the agent \(i\) considers possible (according to \(i\)’s hard information). That is, \(K_i(E)=\{w\mid [w]_i\subseteq E\}\).
Partitions or equivalence relations are intended to represent the agents’ hard information at each state. It is wellknown that the knowledge operator satisfies the properties of the epistemic logic \(\mathbf{S5}\) (see Hendricks & Symons 2009 for a discussion). We do not discuss this and related issues here and instead focus on how these models can be used to provide the informational context of a game.
An Example. Consider the following coordination game between Ann (player 1) and Bob (player 2). As is wellknown, there are two purestrategy Nash equilibrium (\((u,l)\) and \((d,r)\)).
Bob  
Ann 

Figure 4: A strategic coordination game between Ann and Bob
The utilities of the players are not important for us at this stage. To construct an epistemic model for this game, we need first to specify what are the states of nature we will consider. For simplicity, take them to be the set of strategy profiles \(S=\{(u,l),(d,l),(u,r),(d,l)\}\). The set of agents is of course \(\Agt=\{A,B\}\). What will be the set of states \(W\)? We start by assuming \(W=S\), so there is exactly one possible world corresponding to each state of nature. This needs not be so, but here this will help to illustrate our point.
There are many different partitions for Ann and Bob that we can use to complete the description of this simple epistemic model. Not all of the partitions are appropriate for analyzing the ex interim stage of the decisionmaking process, though. For example, suppose \(\Pi_{A}=\Pi_{B}=\{W\}\) and consider the event \(U=\{(u,l),(u,r)\}\) representing the situation where Ann chooses \(u\). Notice that \(K_A(U)=\emptyset\) since for all \(w\in W\), \(\Pi_A(w)\not\subseteq U\), so there is no state where Ann knows that she chooses \(u\). This means that this model is appropriate for reasoning about the ex ante stage rather than the ex interim stage. This is easily fixed with an additional technical assumption: Suppose \(S\) is a set of strategy profiles for some (strategic or extensive) game with players \(\A=\{1,\ldots,n\}\).
A model \(\M=\langle W, \{\Pi_i\}_{i\in \A},\sigma \rangle\) is said to be an ex interim epistemic model if for all \(i\in\Agt\) and \(w,v\in W\), if \(v\in\Pi_i(w)\) then \(\sigma_i(w)=\sigma_i(v)\)
where \(\sigma_i(w)\) is the \(i\)^{th} component of the strategy profile \(s\in S\) assigned to \(w\) by \(\sigma\). An example of an ex interim epistemic model with states \(W\) is:
\(\Pi_A=\{\{(u,l),(u,r)\},\{(d,l),(d,r)\}\}\) and
\(\Pi_B=\{\{(u,l),(d,l)\},\{(u,r),(d,r)\}\}\).
Note that this simply reinterprets the game matrix in Figure 1 as an epistemic model where the rows are Ann’s information sets and the columns are Bob’s information sets. Unless otherwise stated, we will always assume that our epistemic models are ex interim. The class of ex interim epistemic models is very rich with models describing the (hard) information the agents have about their own choices, the (possible) choices of the other players and higherorder (hard) information (e.g., “Ann knows that Bob knows that…”) about these decisions.
We now look at the epistemic model described above in more detail. We will often use the following diagrammatic representation of the model to ease exposition. States are represented by nodes in a graph where there is a (undirected) edge between states \(w_i\) and \(w_j\) when \(w_i\) and \(w_j\) are in the same partition cell. We use a solid line labeled with \(A\) for Ann’s partition and a dashed line labeled with \(B\) for Bob’s partition (reflexive edges are not represented for simplicity). The event \(U=\{w_1,w_3\}\) representing the proposition “Ann decided to choose option \(u\)” is the shaded gray region:
Figure 5
Notice that the following events are true at all states:
\( K_B(U)\): “Bob does not know that Ann decided to choose \(u\)”
\(K_B(K_A(U)\vee K_A(U))\): “Bob knows that Ann knows whether she has decided to choose \(u\)”
\(K_A(K_B(U))\): “Ann knows that Bob does not know that she has decided to choose \(u\)”
In particular, these events are true at state \(w_1\) where Ann has decided to choose \(u\) (i.e., \(w_1\in U\)). The first event makes sense given the assumptions about the available information at the ex interim stage: each player knows their own choice but not the other players’ choices. The second event is a concrete example of another assumption about the available information: Bob has the information that Ann has, in fact, made some choice. But what warrants Ann to conclude that Bob does not know she has chosen \(u\) (the third event)? This is a much more significant statement about what Ann knows about what Bob expects her to do. Indeed, in certain contexts, Ann may have very good reasons to think it is possible that Bob actually knows she will choose \(u\). We can find an ex interim epistemic model where this event (\(K_A(K_B(U))\)) is true at \(w_1\), but this requires adding a new possible world:
Figure 6
Notice that since \(\Pi_B(w')=\{\{w'\}\}\subseteq U\) we have \(w'\in K_B(U)\). That is, Bob knows that Ann chooses \(u\) at state \(w'\). Finally, a simple calculation shows that \(w_1\in K_A(K_B(U))\), as desired. Of course, we can question the other substantive assumptions builtin to this model (e.g., at \(w_1\), Bob knows that Ann does not know he will choose \(L\)) and continue modifying the model. This raises a number of interesting conceptual and technical issues which we discuss in Section 7.
2.2.1 Adding Beliefs
So far we have looked at relational models of hard information. A small modification of these models allows us to model a softer informational attitude. Indeed, by simply replacing the assumption of reflexivity of the relation \(\sim_i\) with seriality (for each state \(w\) there is a state \(v\) such that \(w\sim_i v\)), but keeping the other aspects of the model the same, we can capture what epistemic logicians have called “beliefs”. Formally, a doxastic model is a tuple \(\langle W, \{R_i\}_{i\in\Agt},V\rangle\) where \(W\) is a nonempty set of states, \(R_i\) is a transitive, Euclidean and serial relation on \(W\) and \(V\) is a valuation function (cf. Definition 2.1). This notion of belief is very close to the above hard informational attitude and, in fact, shares all the properties of \(K_i\) listed above except Veracity (this is replaced with a weaker assumption that agents are “consistent” and so cannot believe contradictions). This points to a logical analysis of both informational attitudes with various “bridge principles” relating knowledge and belief (such as knowing something implies believing it or if an agent believes \(\phi\) then the agent knows that he believes it). However, we do not discuss this line of research here since these models are not our preferred ways of representing the agents’ soft information (see, for example, Halpern 1991 and Stalnaker 2006).
Plausibility Orderings
A key aspect of beliefs which is not yet represented in the above models is that they are revisable in the presence of new information. While there is an extensive literature on the theory of belief revision in the “AGM” style (Alchourrón, Gärdenfors, & Makinson 1985), we focus on how to extend an epistemic model with a representation of softer, revisable informational attitudes. The standard approach is to include a plausibility ordering for each agent: a preorder (reflexive and transitive) denoted \(\preceq_i\,\subseteq W\times W\). If \(w\preceq_i v\) we say “player \(i\) considers \(w\) at least as plausible as \(v\).” For an event \(X\subseteq W\), let
\[ Min_{\preceq_i}(X)=\{v\in W\ \ v\preceq_i w \text{ for all \(w\in X\) }\} \]denote the set of minimal elements of \(X\) according to \(\preceq_i\). Thus while the \(\sim_i\) partitions the set of possible worlds according to the agents’ hard information, the plausibility ordering \(\preceq_i\) represents which of the possible worlds the agent considers more likely (i.e., it represents the players soft information).
Definition 2.4 (EpistemicPlausibility Models) Suppose that \(G\) is a strategic game, \(S\) is the set of strategy profiles of \(G\), and \(\A\) is the set of players. An epistemicplausibility model is a tuple \(\langle W,\{\Pi_i\}_{i\in \Agt}, \{\preceq_i\}_{i\in \Agt},\sigma\rangle\) where \(\kripkemodel\) is an epistemic model, \(\sigma:W\rightarrow S\) and for each \(i\in\Agt\), \(\preceq_i\) is a wellfounded,^{[9]} reflexive and transitive relation on \(W\) satisfying the following properties, for all \(w,v\in W\)
 plausibility implies possibility: if \(w\preceq_i v\) then \(v\in \Pi_i(w)\).
 locallyconnected: if \(v\in \Pi_i(w)\) then either \(w\preceq_i v\) or \(v\preceq_i w\).
Remark 2.5 Note that if \(v\not\in\Pi_i(w)\) then \(w\not\in \Pi_i(v)\). Hence, by property 1, \(w\not\preceq_i v\) and \(v\not\preceq_i w\). Thus, we have the following equivalence: \(v\in \Pi_i(w)\) iff \(w\preceq_i v\) or \(v\preceq_i w\).
Local connectedness implies that \(\preceq_i\) totally orders \(\Pi_i(w)\) and wellfoundedness implies that \(Min_{\preceq_i}(\Pi_i(w))\) is nonempty. This richer model allows us to formally define a variety of (soft) informational attitudes. We first need some additional notation: the plausibility relation \(\preceq_i\) can be lifted to subsets of \(W\) as follows^{[10]}
\[ X\preceq_i Y\text{ iff \(x\preceq_i y\) for all \(x\in X\) and \(y\in Y\) } \]Suppose \(\M=\plausmodel\) is an epistemicplausibility model, consider the following operators (formally, each is a function from \(\pow(W)\) to \(\pow(W)\) similar to the knowledge operator defined above):
Belief: \(B_i(E)=\{w \mid Min_{\preceq_i}(\Pi_i(w))\subseteq E\}\)
This is the usual notion of belief which satisfies the standard properties discussed above (e.g., consistency, positive and negative introspection).Robust Belief: \(B_i^r(E)=\{w \mid v\in E, \mbox{ for all } v \mbox{ with } w \preceq_i v\}\)
So, \(E\) is robustly believed if it is true in all worlds more plausible then the current world. This stronger notion of belief has also been called certainty by some authors (cf. Shoham & LeytonBrown 2008: sec. 13.7).Strong Belief:
\[ B_i^s(E)=\{w \mid E \cap \Pi_i (w) \neq \emptyset \text{ and } E \cap \Pi_i (w) \preceq_{i}  E \cap \Pi_i(w)\} \]So, \(E\) is strongly believed provided it is epistemically possible and agent \(i\) considers any state in \(E\) more plausible than any state in the complement of \(E\).
It is not hard to see that if agent \(i\) knows that \(E\) then \(i\) (robustly, strongly) believes that \(E\). However, much more can be said about the logical relationship between these different notions. (The logic of these notions has been extensively studied by Alexandru Baltag and Sonja Smets in a series of articles, see Baltag & Smets 2009 in Other Internet Resources for references.)
As noted above, a crucial feature of these informational attitudes is that they may be defeated by appropriate evidence. In fact, we can characterize these attitudes in terms of the type of evidence which can prompt the agent to adjust her beliefs. To make this precise, we introduce the notion of a conditional belief: suppose \(\M=\plausmodel\) is an epistemicplausibility model and \(E\) and \(F\) are events, then the conditional belief operator is defined as follows:
\[ B_i^F(E)=\{w \mid Min_{\preceq_i}(F\cap\Pi_i(w))\subseteq E\} \]So, ‘\(B_i^F\)’ encodes what agent \(i\) will believe upon receiving (possibly misleading) evidence that \(F\) is true.
We conclude this section with an example to illustrate the above concepts. Recall again the coordination game of Figure 4: there are two actions for player 1 (Ann), \(u\) and \(d\), and two actions for player 2 (Bob), \(r\) and \(l\). Again, the preferences (or utilities) of the players are not important at this stage since we are only interested in describing the players’ information. The following epistemicplausibility model is a possible description of the players’ informational attitudes that can be associated with this game. The solid lines represent player 1’s informational attitudes and the dashed line represents player 2’s. The arrows correspond to the players plausibility orderings with an \(i\)arrow from \(w\) to \(v\) meaning \(v\preceq_i w\) (we do not draw all the arrows: each plausibility ordering can be completed by filling in arrows that result from reflexivity and transitivity). The different regions represent the players’ hard information.
Figure 7
Suppose that the actual state of play is \(w_4\). So, player 1 (Ann) chooses \(u\) and player 2 (Bob) chooses \(r\). Further, suppose that \(L= \{w_1,w_2,w_5\}\) is the event where where player 2 chooses \(l\) (similarly for \(U\), \(D\), and \(R\))
\(B_1(L)\): “player 1 believes that player 2 is choosing \(L\)”
\(B_1(B_2(U))\): “player 1 believes that player 2 believes that player 1 chooses \(u\)”
\(B_1^{R} ( B_2(U))\): “given that player 2 chooses \(r\), player 1 believes that player 2 does not believe she is choosing \(u\)”
This last formula is interesting because it “preencodes” what player 1 would believe upon learning that player 2 is choosing \(R\). Note that upon receiving this true information, player 1 drops her belief that player 2 believes she is choosing \(u\). The situation can be even more interesting if there are statements in the language that reveal only partial information about the player strategy choices. Suppose that \(E\) is the event \(\{w_4,w_6\}\). Now \(E\) is true at \(w_4\) and player 2 believes that player 1 chooses \(d\) given that \(E\) is true (i.e., \(w_4\in B_2^E(D)\)). So, player 1 can “bluff” by revealing the true (though partial) information \(E\).
Probabilities
The above models use a “crisp” notion of uncertainty, i.e., for each agent and state \(w\), any other state \(v\in W\) either is or is not possible at/more plausible than \(w\). However, there is an extensive body of literature focused on graded, or quantitative, models of uncertainty (Huber 2009; Halpern 2003). For instance, in the Game Theory literature it is standard to represent the players’ beliefs by probabilities (Aumann 1999b; Harsanyi 1967–68). The idea is simple: replace the plausibility orderings with probability distributions:
Definition 2.6 (EpistemicProbability Model) Suppose that \(G\) is a strategic game, \(S\) is the set of strategy profiles of \(G\), and \(\A\) is the set of players. An epistemicprobabilistic model is a tuple
\[ \M=\langle W,\{\sim_i\}_{i\in\Agt},\{P_i\}_{i\in\Agt},\sigma\rangle \]where \(\kripkemodel\) is an epistemic model and
\begin{align} & P_i:W\rightarrow \Delta(W) \\ & \Delta(W)=\{p:W\rightarrow [0,1] \mid p \text{ is a probability measure}\} \end{align}assigns to each state a probability measure over \(W\). Write \(p_i^w\) for the \(i\)’s probability measure at state \(w\). We make two natural assumptions (cf. Definition 2.4):
For all \(v\in W\), if \(p_i^w(v)>0\) then \(p_i^w=p_i^v\); and
For all \(v\not\in\Pi_i(w)\), \(p_i^w(v)=0\).
Property 1 says that if \(i\) assigns a nonzero probability to state \(v\) at state \(w\) then the agent uses the same probability measure at both states. This means that the players “know” their own probability measures. The second property implies that players must assign a probability of zero to all states outside the current (hard) information cell. These models provide a very precise description of the players’ hard and soft informational attitudes. However, note that writing down a model requires us to specify a different probability measure for each partition cell which can be quite cumbersome. Fortunately, the properties in the above definition imply that, for each agent, we can view the agent’s probability measures as arising from one probability measure through conditionalization. Formally, for each \(i\in\Agt\), agent \(i\)’s (subjective) prior probability is any element of \(p_i\in\Delta(W)\). Then, in order to define an epistemicprobability model we need only give for each agent \(i\in\Agt\), (1) a prior probability \(p_i\in\Delta(W)\) and (2) a partition \(\Pi_i\) on \(W\) such that for each \(w\in W\), \(p_i(\Pi_i(w))>0\). The probability measures for each \(i\in\Agt\) are then defined by:
\[ P_i(w)= p_i(\cdot \mid \Pi_i(w)) = \frac{p_i(\cdot\cap \Pi_i(w))}{p_i(\Pi_i(w))} \]Of course, the side condition that for each \(w\in W\), \(p_i(\Pi_i(w))>0\) is important since we cannot divide by zero—this will be discussed in more detail in later sections. Indeed, (assuming \(W\) is finite^{[11]}) given any epistemicplausibility model we can find, for each agent, a prior (possibly different ones for different agents) that generates the model as described above. This is not only a technical observation: it means that we are assuming that the players’ beliefs about the outcome of the situation are fixed ex ante with the ex interim beliefs being derived through conditionalization on the agent’s hard information. (See Morris 1995 for an extensive discussion of the situation when there is a common prior.) We will return to these key assumptions throughout the text.
As above we can define belief operators, this time specifying the precise degree to which an agent believes an event:
Probabilistic belief: \(B_i^r(E)=\{w \mid p_i^w(E)=r\}\)
Here, \(r\) can be any real number in the unit interval; however, it is often enough to restrict attention to the rational numbers in the unit interval.Full belief: \(B_i(E)=B_i^1(E)=\{w \mid p_i^w(E)=1\}\)
\[ B_i(E)=\{w \mid \text{for all \(v\), if \(p_i^w(v)>0\) then \(v\in E\)}\} \]
So, full belief is defined to belief with probability one. This is a standard assumption in this literature despite a number of wellknown conceptual difficulties (see Huber 2009 for an extensive discussion of this and related issues). It is sometimes useful to work with the following alternative characterization of fullbelief (giving it a more “modal” flavor): Agent \(i\) believes \(E\) at state \(w\) provided all the states that \(i\) assigns positive probability to at \(w\) are in \(E\). Formally,
These models have also been subjected to sophisticated logical analyses (Fagin, Halpern, & Megiddo 1990; Heifetz & Mongin 2001) complementing the logical frameworks discussed above (cf. Baltag & Smets 2006).
We conclude this section with an example of an epistemicprobability model. Recall again the coordination game of Figure 4: there are two actions for player 1 (Ann), \(u\) and \(d\), and two actions for player 2 (Bob), \(r\) and \(l\). The preferences (or utilities) of the players are not important at this stage since we are only interested in describing the players’ information.
Figure 8
The solid lines are Ann’s information partition and the dashed lines are Bob’s information partition. We further assume there is a common prior \(p_0\) with the probabilities assigned to each state written to the right of the state. Let \(E=\{w_2,w_5,w_6\}\) be an event. Then, we have
\(B_1^{\frac{1}{2}}(E)=\{w \mid p_0(E \mid \Pi_1(w))=\frac{p_0(E\cap\Pi_1(w))}{p_0(\Pi_1(w))}=\frac{1}{2}\}=\{w_1,w_2,w_3\}\): “Ann assigns probability 1/2 to the event \(E\) given her information cell \(\Pi_1(w_1)\).
\(B_2(E)=B_2^1(E)=\{w_2,w_5,w_3,w_6\}\). In particular, note that at \(w_6\), the agent believes (with probability 1) that \(E\) is true, but does not know that \(E\) is true as \(\Pi_2(w_6)\not\subseteq E\). So, there is a distinction between states the agent considers possible (given their “hard information”) and states to which players assign a nonzero probability.
Let \(U=\{w_1,w_2,w_3\}\) be the event that Ann plays \(u\) and \(L=\{w_1,w_4\}\) the event that Bob plays \(l\). Then, we have
\(K_1(U)=U\) and \(K_2(L)=L\): Both Ann and Bob know that strategy they have chosen;
\(B_1^{\frac{1}{2}}(L)=U\): At all states where Ann plays \(u\), Ann believes that Bob plays \(L\) with probability 1/2; and
\(B_1(B_2^{\frac{1}{2}}(U))=\{w_1,w_2,w_3\}=U\): At all states where Ann plays \(u\), she believes that Bob believes with probability 1/2 that she is playing \(u\).
2.3 Harsanyi Type Spaces
An alternative approach to modeling beliefs was initiated by Harsanyi in his seminal paper (Harsanyi 1967–68). Rather than “possible worlds”, Harsanyi takes the notion of the players’ type as primitive. Formally, the players are assigned a nonempty set of types. Typically, players are assumed to know their own type but not the types of the other players. As we will see, each type can be associated with a specific hierarchy of belief
Definition 2.7 (Qualitative Type Space) A Qualitative type space for a (nonempty) set of states of nature \(S\) and agents \(\Agt\) is a tuple \(\langle \{T_i\}_{i\in\A}, \{\lambda_i\}_{i\in\Agt},S\rangle\) where for each \(i\in\Agt\), \(T_i\) is a nonempty set and
\[ \lambda_i:T_i\rightarrow \pow(\bigtimes_{j\ne i} T_j\times S). \]So, each type \(t\in T_i\) is associated with a set of tuples consisting of types of the other players and a state of nature. For simplicity, suppose there are only two players, Ann and Bob. Intuitively, \((t',o')\in\lambda_{Ann}(t)\) means that Ann’s type \(t\) considers it possible that the outcome is \(o'\) and Bob is of type \(t'\). Since the players’ uncertainty is directed at the choices and types of the other players, the informational attitude captured by these models will certainly not satisfy the Truth axiom. In fact, qualitative type spaces can be viewed as simply a “repackaging” of the relational models discussed above (cf. Zvesper 2010 for a discussion).
Consider again the running example of the coordination game between Ann and Bob (pictured in Figure 1). In this case, the set of states of nature is \(S=\{(u,l),(d,l),(u,r),(d,r)\}\). In this context, it is natural to modify the definition of the type functions \(\lambda_i\) to account for the fact that the players are only uncertain about the other players’ choices: let \(S_A=\{u,d\}\) and \(S_B=\{l,r\}\) and suppose \(T_A\) and \(T_B\) are nonempty sets of types. Define \(\lambda_A\) and \(\lambda_B\) as follows:
\[ \lambda_A:T_A\rightarrow \pow(T_B\times S_B)\hspace{.5in}\lambda_B:T_B\rightarrow\pow(T_A\times S_A) \]Suppose that there are two types for each player: \(T_A=\{t^A_1,t^A_2\}\) and \(T_B=\{t^B_1,t^B_2\}\). A convenient way to describe the maps \(\lambda_A\) and \(\lambda_B\) is:
\(\lambda_A (T^{A}_{1})\) 

\(\lambda_A (T^{A}_{2})\) 
 
\(\lambda_B (T^{B}_{1})\) 

\(\lambda_B (T^{B}_{2})\) 

Figure 9
where a 1 in the \((t',s)\) entry of the above matrices corresponds to assuming \((t',s)\in\lambda_i(t)\) (\(i=A,B\)). What does it mean for Ann (Bob) to believe an event \(E\) in a type structure? We start with some intuitive observations about the above type structure:
Regardless of what type we assign to Ann, she believes that Bob will choose \(l\) since in both matrices, \(\lambda_A(t_1^A)\) and \(\lambda_A(t_2^A)\), the only places where a 1 appears is under the \(l\) column. So, fixing a type for Ann, in all of the situations Ann considers possible it is true that Bob chooses \(l\).
If Ann is assigned the type \(t_1^A\), then she considers it possible that Bob believes she will choose \(u\). Notice that type \(t_1^A\) has a 1 in the row labeled \(t^B_1\), so she considers it possible that Bob is of type \(t^B_1\), and type \(t^B_1\) believes that Ann chooses \(u\) (the only places where 1 appears is under the \(u\) column).
If Ann is assigned the type \(t_2^A\), then Ann believes that Bob believes that Ann believes that Bob will choose \(l\). Note that type \(t_2^A\) “believes” that Bob will choose \(l\) and furthermore \(t_2^A\) believes that Bob is of type \(t^B_2\) who in turn believes that Ann is of type \(t^A_2\).
We can formalize the above informal observations using the following notions: Fix a qualitative type space \(\langle \{T_i\}_{i\in\A}, \{\lambda_i\}_{i\in\Agt},S\rangle\) for a (nonempty) set of states of nature \(S\) and agents \(\Agt\).
A (global) state, or possible world is a tuple \((t_1,t_2,\ldots,t_n,s)\) where \(t_i\in T_i\) for each \(i=1,\ldots,n\) and \(s\in S\). If \(S=\bigtimes S_i\) is the set of strategy profiles for some game, then we write a possible world as: \((t_1,s_1,t_2,s_2,\ldots,t_n,s_n)\) where \(s_i\in S_i\) for each \(i=1,\ldots,n\).
Type spaces describe the players beliefs about the other players’ choices, so the notion of an event needs to be relativized to an agent. An event for agent \(i\) is a subset of \(\bigtimes_{j\ne i}T_j\times S\). Again if \(S\) is a set of strategy profiles (so \(S=\bigtimes S_i\)), then an event for agent \(i\) is a subset of \(\bigtimes_{j\ne i} (T_j\times S_j)\).
Suppose that \(E\) is an event for agent \(i\), then we say that agent \(i\) believes \(E\) at \((t_1,t_2,\ldots,t_n,s)\) provided \(\lambda(t_1,s)\subseteq E\).
In the specific example above, an event for Ann is a set \(E\subseteq T_B\times S_B\) and we can define the set of pairs \((t^A,s^A)\) that believe this event:
\[ B_A(E)=\{(t^A,s^A) \mid \lambda_A(t^A,s^A)\subseteq E\} \]similarly for Bob. Note that the event \(B_A(E)\) is an event for Bob and vice versa. A small change to the above definition of a type space (Definition 2.7) allows us to represent probabilistic beliefs (we give the full definition here for future reference):
Definition 2.8 (Type Space) A type space for a (nonempty) set of states of nature \(S\) and agents \(\Agt\) is a tuple \(\langle \{T_i\}_{i\in\A}, \{\lambda_i\}_{i\in\Agt},S\rangle\) where for each \(i\in\Agt\), \(T_i\) is a nonempty set and
\[ \lambda_i:T_i\rightarrow \Delta(\bigtimes_{j\ne i} T_j\times S). \]where \(\Delta(\bigtimes_{j\ne i} T_j\times S)\) is the set of probability measures on \(\bigtimes_{j\ne i} T_j\times S\).
Types and their associated image under \(\lambda_i\) encode the players’ (probabilistic) information about the others’ information. Indeed, each type is associated with a hierarchy of belief. More formally, recall that an event \(E\) for a type \(t_i\) is a set of pairs \((\sigma_{j}, t_{j})\), i.e., a set of strategy choices and types for all the other players. Given an event \(E\) for player \(i\), let \(\lambda_i(t_i)(E)\) denote the sum of the probabilities that \(\lambda_i(t_i)\) assigns to the elements of \(E\). The type \(t_i\) of player \(i\) is said to (allout) believe the event \(E\) whenever \(\lambda_i(t_i)(E) = 1\). Conditional beliefs are computed in the standard way: type \(t_i\) believes that \(E\) given \(F\) whenever:
\[ \frac{\lambda_i(t_i)(E \cap F)}{\lambda_i(t_i)(F)} = 1 \]A state in a type structure is a tuple \((\sigma, t)\) where \(\sigma\) is a strategy profile and \(t\) is “type profile”, a tuple of types, one for each player. Let \(B_i(E) = \{(\sigma_{j}, t_{j}) : t_i \text{ believes that } E \}\) be the event (for \(j\)) that \(i\) believes that \(E\). Then agent \(j\) believes that \(i\) believes that \(E\) when \(\lambda_j(t_j)(B_i(E)) = 1\). We can continue in this manner computing any (finite) level of such higherorder information.
Example
Returning again to our running example game where player 1 (Ann) has two available actions \(\{u,d\}\) and player 2 (Bob) has two available actions \(\{l,r\}\). The following type space describes the players’ information: there is one type for Ann (\(t_1\)) and two for Bob (\(t_2,t_2'\)) with the corresponding probability measures given below:
\(\lambda_1(t_1)\) 

Figure 10: Ann's beliefs about Bob
\(\lambda_2(t_2)\) 

\(\lambda_2(t^\prime_2)\) 

Figure 11: Bob's belief about Ann
In this example, since there is only one type for Ann, both of Bob’s types are certain about Ann’s beliefs. If Bob is of type \(t_2\) then he is certain Ann is choosing \(u\) while if he is of type \(t_2'\) he thinks there is a 75% chance she plays \(u\). Ann assigns equal probability (\(0.5\)) to Bob’s types; and so, she believes it is equally likely that Bob is certain she plays \(u\) as Bob thinking there is a 75% chance she plays \(u\). The above type space is a very compact description of the players’ informational attitudes. An epistemicprobabilistic model can describe the same situation (here \(p_i\) for \(i=1,2\) is player \(i\)’s prior probability):
Figure 12
Some simple (but instructive!) calculations can convince us that these two models represent the same situation. The more interesting question is how do these probabilistic models relate to the epistemicdoxastic models of Definition 2.4. Here the situation is more complex. On the one hand, probabilistic models with a graded notion of belief which is much more finegrained than the “allout” notion of belief discussed in the context of epistemicdoxastic models. On the other hand, in an epistemicdoxastic model, conditional believes are defined for all events. In the above models, they are only defined for events that are assigned nonzero probabilities. In other words, epistemicprobabilistic models do not describe what a player may believe upon learning something “surprising” (i.e., something currently assigned probability zero).
A number of extensions to basic probability theory have been discussed in the literature that address precisely this problem. We do not go into details here about these approaches (a nice summary and detailed comparison between different approaches can be found in Halpern (2010) and instead sketch the main ideas. The first approach is to use socalled Popper functions which take conditional probability measures as primitive. That is, for each nonempty event \(E\), there is a probability measure \(p_E(\cdot)\) satisfying the usual Kolmogrov axioms (relativized to \(E\), so for example \(p_E(E)=1\)). A second approach assigns to each agent a finite sequence of probability measures \((p_1,p_2,\ldots,p_n)\) called a lexicographic probability system. The idea is that to condition on \(F\), first find the first probability measure not assigning zero to \(F\) and use that measure to condition on \(F\). Roughly, one can see each of the probability measures in a lexicographic probability system as corresponding to a level of a plausibility ordering. We will return to these notions in Section 5.2.
2.4 Common Knowledge
States in a game model not only represent the player’s beliefs about what their opponents will do, but also their higherorder beliefs about what their opponents are thinking. This means that outcomes identified as “rational” in a particular informational context will depend, in part, on these higherorder beliefs. Both game theorists and logicians have extensively discussed different notions of knowledge and belief for a group, such as common knowledge and belief. In this section, we briefly recount the standard definition of common knowledge. For more information and pointers to the relevant literature, see Vanderschraaf & Sillari (2009) and Fagin et al., (1995: ch. 6).
Consider the statement “everyone in group \(I\) knows that \(E\)”. This is formally defined as follows:
\[ K_I(E)\ \ :=\ \ \bigcap_{i\in I}K_i(E) \]where \(I\) is any nonempty set of players. If \(E\) is common knowledge for the group \(I\), then not only does everyone in the group know that \(E\) is true, but this fact is completely transparent to all members of the group. We first define \(K_I^n(E)\) for each \(n\ge 0\) by induction:
\[ K_I^0(E)=E \qquad{\text{and for \(n\ge 1\),}}\quad K_I^n(E)=K_I(K^{n1}_I(E) \]Then, following Aumann (1976), common knowledge of \(E\) is defined as the following infinite conjunction:
\[ C_I(E)=\bigcap_{n\ge 0}K_I^n(E) \]Unpacking the definitions, we have
\[ C_I(E)=E\cap K_I\phi(E) \cap K_I(K_I(E)) \cap K_I(K_I(K_I(E)))\cap \cdots \]The approach to defining common knowledge outlined above can be viewed as a recipe for defining common (robust/strong) belief (simply replace the knowledge operators \(K_i\) with the appropriate belief operator). See Bonanno (1996) and Lismont & Mongin (1994, 2003) for more information about the logic of common belief. Although we do not discuss it in this entry, a probabilistic variant of common belief was introduced by Monderer & Samet (1989).
3. Choice Rules, or Choosing Optimally
There are many philosophical issues that arise in decision theory, but that is not our concern here. See Joyce 2004 and reference therein for discussions of the main philosophical issues. This section provides enough background on decision theory to understand the key results of epistemic game theory presented in the remainder of this entry.
Decision rules or choice rules determine what each individual player will, or should do, given her preferences and her information in a given context. In the epistemic game theory literature the most commonly used choice rules are: (strict) dominance, maximization of expected utility and admissibility (also known as weak dominance). One can do epistemic analysis of games using alternative choice rules, e.g., minmax regret (Halpern & Pass 2011). In this entry, we focus only on the most common ones.
Decision theorists distinguish between choice under uncertainty and choice under risk. In the latter case, the decision maker has probabilistic information about the possible states of the world. In the former case, there is no such information. There is an extensive literature concerning decision making in both types of situations (see Peterson 2009 for a discussion and pointers to the relevant literature). In the setting of epistemic game theory, the appropriate notion of a “rational choice” depends on the type of game model used to describe the informational context of the game. So, in general, “rationality” should be read as following a given choice rule. The general approach is to start with a definition of an irrational choice (for instance, one that is strictly dominated given one’s beliefs), and then define rationality as not being irrational. Some authors have recently looked at the consequences of lifting this simplifying assumption (cf., the tripartite notion of a categorization in Cubitt & Sugden (2011) and Pacuit & Roy (2011)), but the presentation of this goes beyond the scope of this entry.
Finally, when the underlying notion of rationality goes beyond maximization of expected utility, some authors have reserved the word “optimal” to qualify decisions that meet the latter requirement, but not necessarily the full requirements of rationality. See the remarks in Section 5.2 for more on this.
3.1 Maximization of Expected Utility
Maximization of expected utility is the most wellknown choice rule in decision theory. Given an agent’s preferences (represented as utility functions) and beliefs (represented as subjective probability measures), the expected utility of an action, or option, is the sum of the utilities of the outcomes of the action weighted by the probability that they will occur (according to the agent’s beliefs). The recommendation is to choose the action that maximizes this weighted average. This idea underlies the Bayesian view on practical rationality, and can be straightforwardly defined in type spaces.^{[12]} We start by defining expected utility for a player in a game.
Expected utility
Suppose that \(G=\langle N, \{S_i, u_i\}_{i\in N}\rangle\) is a strategic game. A conjecture for player \(i\) is a probability on the set \(S_{i}\) of strategy profiles of \(i\)’s opponents. That is, a conjecture for player \(i\) is an element of \(\Delta(S_{i})\), the set of probability measures over \(S_{i}\). The expected utility of \(s_i\in S_i\) with respect to a conjecture \(p\in \Delta(S_{i})\) is defined as follows:
\[ EU(s_i,p)\ :=\ \sum_{s_{i}\in S_{i}} p(s_{i})u(s_i, s_{i}) \]A strategy \(s_i\in S_i\) maximizes expected utility for player \(i\) with respect to \(p\in \Delta(S_{i})\) provided for all \(s_i'\in S_i\), \(EU(s_i,p)\ge EU(s_i',p)\). In such a case, we also say \(s_i\) is a best response to \(p\) in game \(G\).
We now can define an event in a type space or epistemicprobability model where all players “choose rationally”, in the sense that their choices maximize expected utility with respect to their beliefs.
Expected utility in type spaces
Let \(G=\langle N, \{S_i, u_i\}_{i\in N}\rangle\) be a strategic game and \(\T=\langle \{T_i\}_{i\in\Agt}, \{\lambda_i\}_{i\in\Agt},S\rangle\) a type space for \(G\). Recall that each \(t_i\) is associated with a probability measure \(\lambda(t_i)\in \Delta(S_{i}\times T_{i})\). Then, for each \(t_i\in T_i\), we can define a probability measure \(p_{t_i}\in \Delta(S_{i})\) as follows:
\[ p_{t_i}(s_{i})= \sum_{t_{i}\in T_{i}}\lambda_i(t_i)(s_{i},t_{i}) \]The set of states (pairs of strategy profiles and type profiles) where player \(i\) chooses rationally is then defined as:
\[ \mathsf{Rat_i}\ :=\ \{(s_i,t_i) \mid s_i \text{ is a best response to } p_{t_i}\} \]The event that all players are rational is
\[ \mathsf{Rat}=\{(s,t) \mid \mbox{ for all } i, (s_i,t_i)\in \mathsf{Rat}_i\}. \]Notice that here types, as opposed to players, maximize expected utility. This is because in type structure, beliefs are associated to types (see Section 2.3 above). The reader acquainted with decision theory will recognize that this is just the standard notion of maximization of expected utility, where the space of uncertainty of each player, i.e., the possible “states of the world” on which the consequences of her action depend, is the possible combinations of types and strategy choices of the other players.
To illustrate the above definitions, consider the game in Figure 4 and the type space in Figure 11. The following calculations show that \((u, t_1)\in \mathsf{Rat}_1\) (\(u\) is the best response for player \(1\) given her beliefs defined by \(t_1\)):
\begin{align*} EU(u,p_{t_1}) &= p_{t_1}(l)u_1(u,l) + p_{t_1}(r)u_1(u,r)\\ & = [\lambda_1(t_1)(l,t_2) + \lambda_1(t_1)(l,t_2')]\cdot u_1(u,l) \\ &\quad\quad\quad + [\lambda_1(t_1)(r,t_2) + \lambda_1(t_1)(r,t_2')] \cdot u_1(u,r) \\ &= (0.5 +0.4) \cdot 3 + (0 + 0.1)\cdot 0 \\ &= 2.7 \end{align*} \begin{align*} EU(d,p_{t_1}) &= p_{t_1}(l)u_1(d,l) + p_{t_1}(r)u_1(d,r)\\ & = [\lambda_1(t_1)(l,t_2) + \lambda_1(t_1)(l,t_2')]\cdot u_1(d,l) \\ &\quad\quad + [\lambda_1(t_1)(r,t_2) + \lambda_1(t_1)(r,t_2')] \cdot u_1(d,r) \\ &= (0.5 +0.4) \cdot 0 + (0 + 0.1)\cdot 1 \\ &= 0.1 \end{align*}A similar calculation shows that \((l, t_2)\in \mathsf{Rat}_2\).
Expected utility in epistemicprobability models
The definition of a rationality event is similar in an epistemicprobability model. For completeness, we give the formal details. Suppose that
\[ G=\langle N, \{S_i, u_i\}_{i\in N}\rangle \]is a strategic game and
\[ \M=\langle W,\{\sim_i\}_{i\in\Agt},\{p_i\}_{i\in\Agt},\sigma\rangle \]is an epistemic probability models with each \(p_i\) a prior probability measure over \(W\). Each state \(w\in W\), let
\[E_{s_i}=\{w\in W \mid (\sigma(w))_{i}=s_{i}\}.\]Then, for each state \(w\in W\), we define a measure \(p_w\in \Delta(S_{i})\) as follows:
\[p_w(s_{i})=p(E_{s_{i}} \mid \Pi_i(w))\]As above,
\[\mathsf{Rat}_i :=\{w \mid \sigma_i(w) \mbox{ is a best response to } p_w\}\]and
\[\mathsf{Rat}:=\bigcap_{i\in \Agt} \mathsf{Rat}_i.\]3.2 Dominance Reasoning
When a game model does not describe the players’ probabilistic beliefs, we are in a situation of choice under uncertainty. The standard notion of “rational choice” in this setting is based on dominance reasoning (Finetti 1974). The two standard notions of dominance are:
Definition 3.1 (Strict Dominance) Suppose that \(G=\langle N, \{S_i, u_i\}_{i\in N}\rangle\) is a strategic game and \(X\subseteq S_{i}\). Let \(m_i, m_i'\in \Delta(S_i)\) be two mixed strategies for player \(i\). The strategy \(m_i\) strictly dominates \(m_i'\) with respect to \(X\) provided
\[\text{for all }s_{i}\in X, U_i(m_i,s_{i}) > U_i(m_i',s_{i}). \]We say \(m_i\) is strictly dominated provided there is some \(m_i'\in \Delta(S_i)\) that strictly dominates \(m_i\).
A strategy \(m_i\in \Delta(S_i)\) strictly dominates \(m_i'\in \Delta(S_i)\) provided \(m_i\) is better than \(m_i'\) (i.e., gives higher payoff to player \(i\)) no matter what the other players do. There is also a weaker notion:
Definition 3.2 (Weak Dominance) Suppose that \(G=\langle N, \{S_i, u_i\}_{i\in N}\rangle\) is a strategic game and \(X\subseteq S_{i}\). Let \(m_i, m_i'\in \Delta(S_i)\) be two mixed strategies for player \(i\). The strategy \(m_i\) weakly dominates \(m_i'\) with respect to \(X\) provided
for all \(s_{i}\in X\), \(U_i(m_i,s_{i})\ge U_i(m_i',s_{i})\)
and
there is some \(s_{i}\in X\) such that \(U_i(m_i,s_{i})> U_i(m_i',s_{i})\).
We say \(m_i\) is weakly dominated provided there is some \(m_i'\in \Delta(S_i)\) that weakly dominates \(m_i\).
So, a mixed strategy \(m_i\) weakly dominates another strategy \(m_i'\) provided \(m_i\) is at least as good as \(m_i'\) no matter what the other players do and there is at least one situation in which \(m_i\) is strictly better than \(m_i'\).
Before we make use of these choice rules, we need to address two potentially confusing issues about these definitions.
The definitions of strict and weak dominance are given in terms of mixed strategies even though we are assuming that players only select pure strategies. That is, we are not considering situations in which players explicitly randomize. In particular, recall that only pure strategies are associated with states in a game model. Nonetheless, it is important to define strict/weak dominance in terms of mixed strategies because there are games in which a pure strategy is strictly (weakly) dominated by a mixed strategy, but not by any of the other pure strategies.
Even though it is important to consider situations in which a player’s pure strategy is strictly/weakly dominated by a mixed strategy, we do not extend the above definitions to probabilities over the opponents’ strategies. That is, we do not replace the above definition with
\(m_i\) is strictly \(p\)dominates \(m_i'\) with respect to \(X\subseteq \Delta(S_{i})\), provided for all \(q\in X\), \(U_i(m_i,q)>U_i(m_i',q)\).
This is because both definitions are equivalent. Obviously, \(p\)strict dominance implies strict dominance. To see the converse, suppose that \(m_i'\) is dominated by \(m_i\) with respect to \(X\subseteq S_{i}\). We show that for all \(q\in \Delta(X)\), \(U_i(m_i,q) > U_i(m_i',q)\) (and so \(m_i'\) is \(p\)strictly dominated by \(m_i\) with respect to \(X\)). Suppose that \(q\in \Delta(X)\). Then,
\[U_i(m_i, q)=\kern8pt \sum_{s_{i}\in S_{i}} q(s_{i}) U_i(m_i, s_{i}) >\kern8pt \sum_{s_{i}\in S_{i}} q(s_{i}) U_i(m_i', s_{i})=U_i(m_i',q).\]
The parameter \(X\) in the above definitions is intended to represent the set of strategy profiles that the player \(i\) take to be “live possibilities”. Each state in an epistemic (plausibility) model is associated with a such a set of strategy profiles. Given a possible world \(w\) in a game model, let \(S_{i}(w)\) denote the set of states that player \(i\) “thinks” are possible. The precise definition depends on the type of game model:
Epistemic models Suppose that
\[G=\langle N, \{S_i, u_i\}_{i\in N}\rangle\]is a strategic game and
\[\M=\langle W, \{\Pi_i\}_{i\in N},\sigma\rangle\]is an epistemic model of \(G\). For each player \(i\) and \(w\in W\), define the set \(S_{i}(w)\) as follows:
\[S_{i}(w)= \{\sigma_{i}(v) \mid v\in\Pi_i(w)\}\]EpistemicPlausibility Models Suppose that
\[G=\langle N, \{S_i, u_i\}_{i\in N}\rangle\]is a strategic game and
\[\M=\langle W, \{\sim_i\}_{i\in N},\{\preceq_i\}_{i\in N}, \sigma\rangle\]is an epistemicplausibility model of \(G\). For each player \(i\) and \(w\in W\), define the set \(S_{i}(w)\) as follows:
\[S_{i}(w)= \{\sigma_{i}(v) \mid v\in Min_{\preceq_i}([w]_i)\}\]In either case, we say that a choice at state \(w\) is sdrational for player \(i\) at state \(w\) provided it is not strictly dominated with respect to \(S_{i}(w)\). The event in which \(i\) chooses rationality is then defined as
\[\mathsf{Rat_i^{sd}}\ :=\ \{w \mid \text{\(\sigma_i(w)\) is not strictly dominated with respect to \(S_{i}(w)\)}\}. \]In addition, we have \(\mathsf{Rat^{sd}}\ :=\ \bigcap_{i\in N}\mathsf{Rat_i^{sd}}\). Similarly, we can define the set of states in which player \(i\) is playing a strategy that is not weakly dominated, denoted \(\mathsf{Rat_i^{wd}}\) and \(\mathsf{Rat^{wd}}\) using weak dominance.
Knowledge of one’s own action, the trademark of exinterim situations, plays an important role in the above definitions. It enforces that \(\sigma_i(w') = \sigma_i(w)\) whenever \(w'\in \Pi_i(w)\). This means that player \(i\)’s rationality is assessed on the basis of the result of her current choice according to different combinations of actions of the other players.
An important special case is when the players consider all of their opponents’ strategies possible. It should be clear that a rational player will never choose a strategy that is strictly dominated with respect to \(S_{i}\). That is, if \(s_i\) is strictly dominated with respect that \(S_{i}\), then there is no informational context in which it is rational for player \(i\) to choose \(s_i\). This can be made more precise using the following wellknown Lemma.
Lemma 3.1 Suppose that \(G=\langle N, \{S_i, u_i\}_{i\in N}\rangle\) is a strategic game. A strategy \(s_i\in S_i\) is strictly dominated (possibly by a mixed strategy) with respect to \(X\subseteq S_{i}\) iff there is no probability measure \(p\in \Delta(X)\) such that \(s_i\) is a best response with respect to \(p\).
The proof of this Lemma is given in the supplement, Section 1.
The general conclusion is that no dominated strategy can maximize expected utility at a given state; and, conversely, if there is a strategy that is not a best in a specific context, then it is not strictly dominated.
Similar facts hold about weak dominance, though the situation is more subtle. The crucial observation is that there is a characterization of weak dominance in terms of best response to certain types of probability measures. A probability measure \(p\in \Delta(X)\) is said to have full support (with respect to \(X\)) if \(p\) assigns positive probability to every element of \(X\) (formally, \(supp(p)=\{x\in X \mid p(x)>0\}=X\)). Let \(\Delta^{>0}(X)\) be the set of full support probability measures on \(X\). A full support probability on \(S_{i}\) means that player \(i\) does not completely rule out (in the sense, that she assigns zero probability to) any strategy profiles of her opponents. The following analogue of Lemma 3.1 is also wellknown:
Lemma 3.2 Suppose that \(G=\langle N, \{S_i, u_i\}_{i\in N}\rangle\) is a strategic game. A strategy \(s_i\in S_i\) is weakly dominated (possibly by a mixed strategy) with respect to \(X\subseteq S_{i}\) iff there is no full support probability measure \(p\in \Delta^{>0}(X)\) such that \(s_i\) is a best response with respect to \(p\).
The proof of this Lemma is more involved. See Bernheim (1984: Appendix A) for a proof. In order for a strategy \(s_i\) to not be strictly dominated, it is sufficient for \(s_i\) to be a best response to a belief, whatever that belief is, about the opponents’ choices. Admissibility requires something more: the strategy must be a best response to a belief that does not explicitly ruleout any of the opponents’ choices. Comparing these two Lemmas, we see that strict dominance implies weak dominance, but not necessarily vice versa. A strategy might not be a best response to any fullsupport probability measure while being a best response to some particular beliefs, those assigning probability one to a state where the player is indifferent between the outcome of its present action and the potentially inadmissible one.
There is another, crucial, difference between weak and strict dominance. The following observation is immediate from the definition of strict dominance:
Observation 3.3 If \(s_i\) is strictly dominated with respect to \(X\) and \(X'\subseteq X\), then \(s_i\) is strictly dominated with respect to \(X'\).
If a strategy is strictly dominated, it remains so if the player gets more information about what her opponents (might) do. Thus, if a strategy \(s_i\) is strictly dominated in a game \(G\) with respect to the entire set of her opponents’ strategies \(S_{i}\), then it will never be rational (according to the above definitions) in any epistemic (plausibility) model for \(G\). I.e., there are no beliefs player \(i\) can have that makes \(s_i\) rational. The same observation does not hold for weak dominance. The existential part of the definition of weak dominance means that the analogue of Observation 3.3 does not hold for weak dominance: if \(s_i\) is weakly dominated with respect to \(X\) then it need not be the case that \(s_i\) is weakly dominated with respect to some \(X'\subseteq X\).
4. Fundamentals
The epistemic approach to game theory focuses on the choices of individual decision makers in specific informational contexts, assessed on the basis of decisiontheoretic choice rules. This is a bottomup, as opposed to the classical topdown, approach. Early work in this paradigm include Bernheim (1984) and Pearce’s (1984) notion of rationalizability and Aumann’s derivation of correlated equilibrium from the minimal assumption that the players are “Bayesian rational” (Aumann 1987).
An important line of research in epistemic game theory asks under what epistemic conditions will players follow the recommendations of particular solution concept? Providing such conditions is known as an epistemic characterization of a solution concept.
In this section, we present two fundamental epistemic characterization results. The first is a characterization of iterated removal of strictly dominated strategies (henceforth ISDS), and the second is a characterization of backward induction. These epistemic characterization results are historically important. They mark the beginning of epistemic game theory as we know it today. Furthermore, they are also conceptually important. The developments in later sections build on the ideas presented in this section.
4.1 Iterated Removal of Strictly Dominated Strategies
The central result of epistemic game theory is that “rationality and common belief in rationality implies iterated elimination of strictly dominated strategies.” This result is already covered in Vanderschraaf & Sillari (2009). For that reason, instead of focusing on the formal details, the emphasis here will be on its significance for the epistemic foundations of game theory. One important message is that the result highlights the importance of higherorder information.
4.1.1 The Result
Iterated elimination of strictly dominated strategies (ISDS) is a solution concept that runs as follows. First, remove from the original game any strategy that is strictly dominated for player \(i\) (with respect to all of the opponents’ strategy profiles). After having removed the strictly dominated strategies in the original game, look at the resulting subgame, remove the strategies which have become strictly dominated there, and repeat this process until the elimination does not remove any strategies. The profiles that survive this process are said to be iteratively nondominated.
For example, consider the following strategic game:
Bob  
Ann 

Figure 13
Note that \(r\) is strictly dominated for player \(2\) with respect to \(\{t, m, b\}\). Once \(r\) is removed from the game, we have \(b\) is strictly dominated for player 1 with respect to \(\{l, c\}\). Thus, \(\{(t,l), (t,c), (m,l), (m,c)\}\) are iteratively undominated. That is, iteratively removing strictly dominated strategies generates the following sequence of games:

\(\ \rightarrowtail\ \) 

\(\ \rightarrowtail\ \) 

Figure 14
For arbitrary large (finite) strategic games, if all players are rational and there is common belief that all players are rational, then they will choose a strategy that is iteratively nondominated. The result is credited to Bernheim (1984) and Pearce (1984). See Spohn (1982) for an early version, and Brandenburger & Dekel (1987) for the relation with correlated equilibrium.
Before stating the formal result, we illustrate the result with an example. We start by describing an “informational context” of the above game. To that end, define a type space \(\T=\langle \{T_1, T_2\}, \{\lambda_1,\lambda_2\}, S\rangle\), where \(S\) is the strategy profiles in the above game, there are two types for player 1 \((T_1=\{t_1, t_2\})\) and three types for player 2 \((T_2=\{s_1, s_2, s_3\})\). The type functions \(\lambda_i\) are defined as follows:
\(\lambda_1(t_1)\) 

\(\lambda_1(t_2)\) 

\(\lambda_2(s_1)\) 

\(\lambda_2(s_2)\) 

\(\lambda_2(s_3)\) 

Figure 15
We then consider the pairs \((s,t)\) where \(s\in S_i\) and \(t\in T_i\) and identify all the rational pairs (i.e., where \(s\) is a best response to \(\lambda_i(t)\), see the previous section for a discussion):
\(\mathsf{Rat_1}=\{(t, t_1), (m, t_1), (b,t_2)\}\)
\(\mathsf{Rat_2}=\{(l, s_1), (c,s_1), (l, s_2), (c, s_2), (l, s_3) \}\)
The next step is to identify the types that believe that the other players are rational. In this context, belief means probability 1. For the type \(t_1\), we have \(\lambda_1(t_1)(\mathsf{Rat}_2)=1\); however,
\[\lambda_1(t_2)(s_2,r)=0.5>0,\]but \((r,s_2)\not\in \mathsf{Rat_2}\), so \(t_2\) does not believe that player \(2\) is rational. This can be turned into an iterative process as follows: Let \(R_i^1=\mathsf{Rat_i}\). We first need some notation. Suppose that for each \(i\), \(R_i^n\) has been defined. Then, define \(R_{i}^n\) as follows:
\[R_{i}^n=\{(s,t) \mid \text{\(s\in S_{i}\), \(t\in T_{j}\), and for each \(j\ne i\), \((s_j,t_j)\in R_j^n\)}\}. \]For each \(n>1\), define \(R_i^n\) inductively as follows:
\[R_i^{n+1}=\{(s,t) \mid (s,t)\in R_i^n \text{ and \(\lambda_i(t)\) assigns probability 1 to \(R_{i}^n\)}\} \]Thus, we have \(R_1^2=\{(t, t_1), (m, t_1)\}\). Note that \(s_2\) assigns nonzero probability to the pair \((m,t_2)\) which is not in \(R_1^1\), so \(s_2\) does not believe that \(1\) is rational. Thus, we have \(R_2^2=\{(l,s_1), (c,s_1),(l,s_3)\}\). Continuing with this process, we have \(R_1^2=R_1^3\). However, \(s_3\) assigns nonzero probability to \((b,t_2)\) which is not in \(R_1^2\), so \(R_2^3=\{(l, s_1), (c,s_1)\}\). Putting everything together, we have
\[\bigcap_{n\ge 1}R^n_1\ \times \ \bigcap_{n\ge 1}R^n_2=\{(t, t_1), (m, t_1)\}\times \{(l, s_1), (c, s_1)\}. \]Thus, all the profiles that survive iteratively removing strictly dominated strategies \((\{(t,l), (m,l), (t,c), (m,c)\})\) are consistent with states where the players are rational and commonly believe they are rational.
Note that, the above process need not generate all strategies that survive iteratively removing strictly dominated strategies. For example, consider a type space with a single type for player 1 assigning probability 1 to the single type of player 2 and \(l\), and the single type for player 2 assigning probability 1 to the single type for player 1 and \(u\). Then, \((u,l)\) is the only strategy profile in this model and obviously rationality and common belief of rationality is satisfied. However, for any type space, if a strategy profile is consistent with rationality and common belief of rationality, then it must be a strategy that is in the set of strategies that survive iteratively removing strictly dominated strategies.
Theorem 4.1 Suppose that \(G\) is a strategic game and \(\T\) is any type space for \(G\). If \((s,t)\) is a state in \(\T\) in which all the players are rational and there is common belief of rationality—formally, for each \(i\),
\[(s_i, t_i)\in \bigcap_{n\ge 1} R_i^n\]—then \(s\) is a strategy profile that survives iteratively removal of strictly dominated strategies.
This result establishes sufficient conditions for ISDS. It has also a converse direction: given any strategy profile that survives iterated elimination of strictly dominated strategies, there is a model in which this profile is played where all players are rational and this is common knowledge. In other words, one can always view or interpret the choice of a strategy profile that would survive the iterative elimination procedure as one that results from common knowledge of rationality. Of course, this form of the converse is not particularly interesting as we can always define a type space where all the players assign probability 1 to the given strategy profile (and everyone playing their requisite strategy). Much more interesting is the question whether the entire set of strategy profiles that survive iteratively removal of strictly dominated strategies is consistent with rationality and common belief in rationality. This is covered by the following theorem of Brandenburger & Dekel (1987) (cf. also Tan & Werlang 1988):
Theorem 4.2 For any game \(G\), there is a type structure for that game in which the strategy profiles consistent with rationality and common belief in rationality is the set of strategies that survive iterative removal of strictly dominated strategies.
See Friedenberg & Keisler (2010) for the strongest versions of the above results. Analogues of the above results have been proven using different game models (e.g., epistemic models, epistemicplausibility models, etc.). For example, see Apt & Zvesper (2010) proofs of corresponding theorems using Kripke models.
4.1.2 Philosophical Issues
Many authors have pointed out the strength of the common belief assumption in the results of the previous section (see, e.g., Gintis 2009; Bruin 2010). It requires that the players not only believe that the others are not choosing an irrational strategy, but also to believe that everybody believes that nobody is choosing an irrational strategy, and everyone believes that everyone believes that everyone believes that nobody is choosing an irrational strategy, and so on. It should be noted, however, that this unbounded character is there only to ensure that the result holds for arbitrary finite games. For a particular game and a model for it, a finite iteration of “everybody believes that” suffices to ensure a play that survives the iterative elimination procedure.
A possible reply to the criticism of the infinitary nature of the common belief assumption is that the result should be seen as the analysis of a benchmark case, rather than a description of genuine game playing situations or a prescription for what rational players should do (Aumann 2010). Indeed, common knowledge/belief of rationality has long been used as an informal explanation of the idealizations underlying classical gametheoretical analyses (Myerson 1991). The results above show that, once formalized, this assumption does indeed lead to a classical solution concept, although, interestingly, not the wellknown Nash equilibrium, as is often informally claimed in early gametheoretic literature. Epistemic conditions for Nash equilibrium are presented in Section 5.1.
The main message to take away from the results in the previous section is: Strategic reasoning in games involves higherorder information. This means that, in particular,
“Bayesian rationality” alone—i.e., maximization of expected utility—is not sufficient to ensure a strategy profile is played that is iteratively undominated, in the general case.
In general, firstorder belief of rationality will not do either. Exactly how many levels of beliefs is needed to guarantee “rational play” in game situations is still the subject of much debate (Kets 2014; Colman 2003; de Weerd, Verbrugge, & Verheij 2013; Rubinstein 1989). There are two further issues we need to address.
First of all, how can agents arrive at a context where rationality is commonly believed? The above results do not answer that question. This has been the subject of recent work in Dynamic Epistemic Logic (van Benthem 2003). In this literature, this question is answered by showing that the agents can eliminate all higherorder uncertainty regarding each others’ rationality, and thus ensure that no strategy is played that would not survive the iterated elimination procedure, by repeatedly and publicly “announcing” that they are not irrational. In other words, iterated public announcement of rationality makes the players’ expectations converge towards sufficient epistemic conditions to play iteratively nondominated strategies. For more on this dynamic view on solution epistemic characterization see van Benthem (2003); Pacuit & Roy (2011); van Benthem & Gheerbrant (2010); and van Benthem, Pacuit, & Roy (2011).
Second of all, when there are more than two players, the above results only hold if players can believe that the choices of their opponents are correlated (Bradenburger & Dekel 1987; Brandenburger & Friedenberg 2008). The following example from Brandenburger & Friedenberg (2008) illustrates this point. Consider the following three person game where Ann’s strategies are \(S_A=\{u,d\}\), Bob’s strategies are \(S_B=\{l,r\}\) and Charles’ strategies are \(S_C=\{x,y,z\}\) and their respective preferences for each outcome are given in the corresponding cell:




x  y  z 
Figure 16
Note that \(y\) is not strictly dominated for Charles. It is easy to find a probability measure \(p\in\Delta(S_A\times S_B)\) such that \(y\) is a best response to \(p\). Suppose that \(p(u,l)=p(d,r)=\frac{1}{2}\). Then, \(EU(x,p)=EU(z,p)=1.5\) while \(EU(y,p)=2\). However, there is no probability measure \(p\in \Delta(S_A\times S_B)\) such that \(y\) is a best response to \(p\) and \(p(u,l)=p(u)\cdot p(l)\) (i.e., Charles believes that Ann and Bob’s choices are independent). To see this, suppose that \(a\) is the probability assigned to \(u\) and \(b\) is the probability assigned to \(l\). Then, we have:
The expected utility of \(y\) is
\[2ab + 2(1a)(1b);\]The expected utility of \(x\) is
\[3ab + 3a(1b)=3a(b+(1b))=3a;\]and
The expected utility of \(z\) is
\begin{align*} 3(1a)b+3(1a)(1b) &= 3(1a)(b+(1b))\\ & =3(1a). \end{align*}
There are three cases:
Suppose that \(a=1a\) (i.e., \(a=1/2\)). Then,
\begin{align*} 2ab + 2(1a)(1b)&=2ab+2a(1b)\\ &=2a(b+(1b))\\ &=2a<3a. \end{align*}Hence, \(y\) is not a best response.
Suppose that \(a>1a\). Then,
\[2ab + 2(1a)(1b)<2ab+2a(1b)=2a<3a.\]Hence, \(y\) is not a best response.
Suppose that \(1a>a\). Then,
\begin{align*} 2ab + 2(1a)(1b) &<2(1a)b+2(1a)(1b) \\ & =2(1a) \\ & < 3(1a). \end{align*}Hence, \(y\) is not a best response.
In all of the cases, \(y\) is not a best response.
4.2 Backward induction
The second fundamental result analyzes the consequences of rationality and common belief/knowledge of rationality in extensive games (i.e., trees instead of matrices). Here, the most wellknown solution concept is the socalled subgame perfect equilibrium, also known as backward induction in games of perfect information. The epistemic characterization of this solution concept is in terms of “substantive rationality” and common belief that all players are substantively rational (cf. also Vanderschraaf & Sillari 2009: sec. 2.8). The main point that we highlight in this section, which is by now widely acknowledged in the literature, is:
Belief revision policies play a key role in the epistemic analysis of extensive games
The most wellknown illustration of this is through the comparison of two apparently contradictory results regarding the consequences of assuming rationality and common knowledge of rationality in extensive games. Aumann (1995) showed that this epistemic condition implies that the players will play according to the backward induction solution while Stalnaker (1998) argued that this is not necessarily true. The crucial difference between these two results is the way in which they model the players’ belief change upon (hypothetically) learning that an opponent has deviated from the backward induction path.
4.2.1 Extensive games: basic definitions
Extensive games make explicit the sequential structure of choices in a game situation. In this section, we focus on games of perfect information in which there is no uncertainty about earlier choices in the game. These games are represented by treelike structures:
Definition 4.3 (Perfect Information Extensive Game) An extensive game is a tuple \(\langle N, T, Act, \tau, \{ u_i \}_{i\in N}\rangle\), where
\(N\) is a finite set of players;
\(T\) is a tree describing the temporal structure of the game situation: Formally, \(T\) consists of a set of nodes and an immediate successor relation \(\rightarrowtail\). Let \(Z\) denote the set of terminal nodes (i.e., nodes without any successors) and \(V\) the remaining nodes (called decision nodes). Let \(v_0\) denote the initial node (i.e., the root of the tree). The edges at a decision node \(v\in V\) are each labeled with actions from a set \(Act\). Let \(Act(v)\) denote the set of actions available at \(v\). Let \(\rightsquigarrow\) be the transitive closure of \(\rightarrowtail\).
\(\tau\) is a turn function assigning a player to each node \(v\in V\) (for a player \(i\in N\), let \(V_i=\{v\in V \mid \tau(v)=i\}\)).
\(u_i: Z\rightarrow \mathbb{R}\) is the utility function for player \(i\) assigning real numbers to outcome nodes.
A strategy is a term of art in extensive games. It denotes a plan for every eventuality, which tells an agent what to do at all histories she is to play, even those which are excluded by the strategy itself.
Definition 4.4 (Strategies) A strategy for player \(i\) is a function \(s_i:V_i \rightarrow Act\) where for all \(v\in V_i\), \(s_i(v)\in Act(v)\). A strategy profile, denoted \({\mathbf{s}}\), is an element of \(\Pi_{i\in N} S_i\). Given a strategy profile \({\mathbf{s}}\), let \({\mathbf{s}}_i\) be player \(i\)’s component of \({\mathbf{s}}\) and \({\mathbf{s}}_{i}\) the sequence of strategies form \({\mathbf{s}}\) for all players except \(i\).
Each strategy profile \({\mathbf{s}}\) generates a path through an extensive game, where a path is a maximal sequence of nodes from the extensive game ordered by the immediate successor relations \(\rightarrowtail\). We say that \(v\) is reached by a strategy profile \({\mathbf{s}}\) is \(v\) is on the path generated by \({\mathbf{s}}\). Suppose that \(v\) is any node in an extensive game. Let \(out(v,{\mathbf{s}})\) be the terminal node that is reached if, starting at node \(v\), all the players move according to their respective strategies in the profile \({\mathbf{s}}\). Given a decision node \(v\in V_i\) for player \(i\), a strategy \(s_i\) for player \(i\), and a set \(X\subseteq S_{i}\) of strategy profiles of the opponents of \(i\), let \(Out_i(v,s_i, X)=\{out(v, (s_i, s_{i})) \mid s_{i}\in X\}\). That is, \(Out_i(v, s_i, X)\) is the set of terminal nodes that may be reached if, starting at node \(v\), player \(i\) uses strategy \(s_i\) and \(i\)’s opponents use strategy profiles from \(X\).
The following example of a perfect information extensive game will be used to illustrate these concepts. The game is an instance of the wellknown centipede game, which has played an important role in the epistemic game theory literature on extensive games.
Figure 17: An extensive game
The decision nodes for \(A\) and \(B\) respectively are \(V_A=\{v_1, v_3\}\) and \(V_B=\{v_2\}\); and the outcome nodes are \(O=\{o_1, o_2, o_3, o_4\}\). The labels of the edges in the above tree are the actions available to each player. For instance, \(Act(v_1)=\{O_1, I_1\}\). There are four strategies for \(A\) and two strategies for \(B\). To simplify notation, we denote the players’ strategies by the sequence of choices at each of their decision nodes. For example, \(A\)’s strategy \(s_A^1\) defined as \(s_A^1(v_1)=O_1\) and \(s_A^1(v_3)=O_3\) is denoted by the sequence \(O_1O_3\). Thus, \(A\)’s strategies are: \(s_A^1=O_1O_3\), \(s_A^2=O_1I_3\), \(s_A^3=I_1O_3\) and \(s_A^4=I_1I_3\). Note that \(A\)’s strategy \(s_A^2\) specifies a move at \(v_3\), even though the earlier move at \(v_1\), \(O_1\), means that \(A\) will not be given a chance to move at \(v_3\). Similarly, Bob’s strategies will be denoted by \(s_B^1=O_2\) and \(s_B^2=I_2\), giving the actions chosen by \(B\) at his decision node. Then, for example, \(out(v_2,(s_A^2, s_B^2))=o_4\). Finally, if \(X=\{s_A^1, s_A^4\}\), then \(Out_B(v_2,s_B^2, X)=\{o_3, o_4\}\).
4.2.2 Epistemic Characterization of Backward Induction
There are a variety of ways to describe the players’ knowledge and beliefs in an extensive game. The game models vary according to which epistemic attitudes are represented (e.g., knowledge and/or various notions of beliefs) and precisely how the players’ disposition to revise their beliefs during a play of the game is represented. Consult Battigalli, Di Tillio, & Samet (2013); Baltag, Smets, & Zvesper (2009); and Battigalli & Siniscalchi (2002) for a sampling of the different types of models found in the literature.
One of the simplest approaches is to use the epistemic models introduced in Section 2.2 (cf. Aumann 1995; Halpern 2001b). An epistemic model of an extensive game \(G=\langle N, T, Act, \tau, \{ u_i \}_{i \in N}\rangle\) is a tuple \(\langle W, \{\Pi_i\}_{i\in N}, \sigma\rangle \) where \(W\) is a nonempty set of states; for each \(i\in N\), \(\Pi_i\) is a partition on \(W\); and \(\sigma:W\rightarrow \Pi_{i\in N} S_i\) is a function assigning to each state \(w\), a strategy profile from \(G\). If \(\sigma(w)={\mathbf{s}}\), then we write \(\sigma_i(w)\) for \({\mathbf{s}}_i\) and \(\sigma_{i}(w)\) for \({\mathbf{s}}_{i}\). As usual, we assume that players know their own strategies: for all \(w\in W\), if \(w'\in \Pi_i(w)\), then \(\sigma_i(w)=\sigma_i(w')\).
The rationality of a strategy at a decision node depends both on what actions the strategy prescribes at all future decision nodes and what the players know about the strategies that their opponents are following. Let \(S_{i}(w)=\{\sigma_{i}(w') \mid w'\in \Pi_i(w)\}\) be the set of strategy profiles of player \(i\)’s opponents that \(i\) thinks are possible at state \(w\). Then, \(Out_i(v, s_i, S_{i}(w))\) is the set of outcomes that player \(i\) thinks are possible starting at node \(v\) if she follows strategy \(s_i\).
Definition 4.5 (Rationality at a decision node) Player \(i\) is rational at node \(v\in V_i\) in state \(w\) provided, for all strategies \(s_i\) such that \(s_i\ne \sigma_i(w)\), there is an \(o'\in Out_i(v, s_i, S_{i}(w))\) and \(o\in Out_i(v, \sigma_i(w), S_{i}(w))\) such that \(u_i(o)\ge u_i(o')\).
So, a player \(i\) is rational at a decision node \(v\in V_i\) in state \(w\) provided that \(i\) does not know that there is an alternative strategy that would give her a higher payoff.
Definition 4.6 (Substantive rationality) Player \(i\) is substantively rational at state \(w\) provided for all decision nodes \(v\in V_i\), \(i\) is rational at \(v\) in state \(w\).
We can define the event that player \(i\) is substantively rational is the standard way: \(\mathsf{Rat}_i=\{w \mid \mbox{player } i\) is substantively rational at state \(w\}\); and so, the event that all players are substantively rational is \(\mathsf{Rat}=\bigcap_{i\in N} \mathsf{Rat}_i\).
This notion of rationality at a decision node \(v\) is forwardlooking in the sense that it only takes account of the possibilities that can arise from that point on in the game. It does not take account of the previous moves leading to \(v\)—i.e., which choices have or could have lead to \(v\). We shall return to this in the discussion below.
An important consequence of this is that the rationality of choices at nodes that are only followed by terminal nodes are independent of the relevant player’s knowledge. Call a node \(v\) preterminal if all of \(v\)’s immediate successors are terminal nodes. At such nodes, it does not matter what strategies the player thinks are possible: If \(v\) is a preterminal node and player \(i\) is moving at \(v\), then for all states in \(w\) in an epistemic model of the game and for all strategies \(s_i\in S_i\), \(Out_i(v, s_i, S_{i}(w))=\{s_i(v)\}\). This means, for example, that for any state \(w\) in an epistemic model for the extensive game in Figure 17, the only strategies that are rational at node \(v_3\) in \(w\) are those that prescribe that \(A\) chooses \(O_3\) at node \(v_3\). Therefore, if \(w\in \mathsf{Rat}_A\), then \(\sigma_A(w)(v_3)=O_3\). Whatever \(A\) knows, or rather knew about what \(B\) would do, if the game reaches the node \(v_3\), then the only rational choice for \(A\) is \(O_3\).
Information about the rationality of players at preterminal nodes is very important for players choosing earlier in the game. Returning to the game in Figure 17, if \(B\) knows that \(A\) is substantively rational at a state \(w\) in an epistemic model of the game, then \(\Pi_B(w)\subseteq \mathsf{Rat}_A\). Given the above argument, this means that if \(w'\in \Pi_B(w)\), then \(\sigma_A(w')(v_3)=O_3\). Thus, we have for any state \(w\) in an epistemic model of the game,
\[Out_B(v_2, I_2, S_{i}(w))=\{o_3\};\]and, of course,
\[Out_B(v_2, O_2, S_{i}(w))=\{o_2\}.\]But then, \((O_2)\) is the only strategy that is rational for \(B\) at \(v_2\) in any state \(w\) (this follows since \(u_B(o_2)=2\ge 1=u_B(o_3)\)). This means that if \(w\in \mathsf{Rat}_B\) and \(\Pi_B(w)\subseteq \mathsf{Rat}_A\), then \(\sigma_B(w)(v_2)=O_2\). Finally, if \(A\) knows that \(B\) knows that \(A\) is substantively rational, then
\[\Pi_A(w)\subseteq K_B\mathsf{Rat}_A=\{w' \mid \Pi_B(w')\subseteq \mathsf{Rat}_A\}.\]A similar argument shows that if \(w\in \mathsf{Rat}_A\) and \(w\in K_A(K_B(\mathsf{Rat}_A))\), then \(\sigma_A(w)(v_1)=O_1\).
The strategy profile \((O_1O_3, O_2)\) is the unique purestrategy subgame perfect equilibrium (Selten 1975) of the game in Figure 17. Furthermore, the reasoning that we went through in the previous paragraphs is very close to backward induction algorithm. This algorithm can be used to calculate the subgame perfect equilibrium in any perfect information game in which all players receive unique payoffs at each outcome.^{[13]} The algorithm runs as follows:
BI Algorithm At terminal nodes, players already have the nodes marked with their utilities. At a nonterminal node \(v\), once all immediate successors are marked, the node is marked as follows: find the immediate successor \(d\) that has the highest utility for player \(\tau(v)\) (the players whose turn it is to move at \(v\)). Copy the utilities from \(d\) onto \(v\).
Given a marked game tree, the unique path that leads from the root \(v_0\) of the game tree to the outcome with the utilities that match the utilities assigned to \(v_0\) is called the backward induction path. In fact, the markings on each and every node (even nodes not on the backward induction path) defines a unique path through the game tree. These paths can be used to define strategies for each player: At each decision node \(v\), choose the action that is consistent with the path from \(v\). Let \(BI\) denote the resulting backward induction profile (where each player is following the strategy given by the backward induction algorithm).
Aumann (1995) showed that the above reasoning can be carried out for any extensive game of perfect information.
Theorem 4.7 (Aumann 1995) Suppose that \(G\) is an extensive game of perfect information and \({\mathbf{s}}\) is a strategy profile for \(G\). The following are equivalent:
There is a state \(w\) in an epistemic model of \(G\) such that \(\sigma(w) = {\mathbf{s}}\) and \(w \in C_N(\mathsf{Rat})\) (there is common knowledge that all players are substantively rational).
\({\mathbf{s}}\) is a subgame perfect equilibrium of \(G\).
This result has been extensively discussed. The standard ground of contention is that common knowledge of rationality used in this argument seems selfdefeating, at least intuitively. Recall that we asked what would \(B\) do at node \(v_2\) under common knowledge of rationality, and we concluded that he would choose \(O_2\). But, if the game ever reaches that state, then, by the theorem above, \(B\) has to conclude that either \(A\) is not rational, or that she does not know that he is. Both violate common knowledge of rationality. Is there a contradiction here? This entry will not survey the extensive literature on this question. The reader can consult the references in Bruin 2010. Our point here is rather that how one looks at this potential paradox hinges on the way the players will revise their beliefs in “future” rationality in the light of observing a move that would be “irrational” under common knowledge of rationality.
4.2.3 Common Knowledge of Rationality without Backward Induction
Stalnaker (1996, 1998) offers a different perspective on backward induction. The difference with Aumann’s analysis is best illustrated with the following example:
Figure 18: An extensive game
In the above game the backward induction profile is \((I_1I_3, I_2)\) leading to the outcome \(o_4\) with both players receiving a payoff of \(3\). Consider an epistemic model with a single state \(w\) where \(\sigma(w)=(O_1I_3,O_2)\). This is not the backward induction profile, and so, by Aumann’s Theorem (Theorem 4.7) it cannot be common knowledge among \(A\) and \(B\) at state \(w\) that both \(A\) and \(B\) are substantively rational.
Recall that a strategy for a player \(i\) specifies choices at all decision nodes for \(i\), even those nodes that are impossible to reach given earlier moves prescribed by the strategy. Thus, strategies include “counterfactual” information about what players would do if they were given a chance to move at each of their decision nodes. In the single state epistemic model, \(B\) knows that \(A\) is following the strategy \(O_1I_3\). This means that \(B\) knows two things about \(A\)’s choice behavior in the game. The first is that \(A\) is choosing \(O_1\) initially. The second is that if \(A\) where given the opportunity to choose at \(v_3\), then she would choose \(I_3\). Now, given \(B\)’s knowledge about what \(A\) is doing, there is a sense in which whatever \(B\) would choose at \(v_2\), his choice is rational. This follows trivially since \(A\)’s initial choice prescribed by her strategy at \(w\) makes it impossible for \(B\) to move. Say that a player \(i\) is materially rational at a state \(w\) in an epistemic model of a game if \(i\) is rational at all decision nodes \(v\in V_i\) in state \(w\) that are reachable according to the strategy profile \(\sigma(w)\). We have seen that \(B\) is trivially materially rational. Furthermore, \(A\) is materially rational since she knows that \(B\) is choosing \(O_2\) (i.e., \(S_{A}(w)=\{O_2\}\)). Thus, \(Out_A(v_1, O_1, S_{i}(w))=\{o_1\}\) and \(Out_A(v_1, O_I, S_{i}(w))=\{o_2\}\); and so, \(A\)’s choice of \(O_1\) at \(v_1\) makes her materially rational at \(w\). The main point of contention between Aumann and Stalnaker boils down to whether the single state epistemic model includes enough information about what exactly \(B\) thinks about \(A\)’s choice at \(v_3\) when assessing the rationality of \(B\)’s hypothetical choice of \(O_2\) at \(v_2\).
According to Aumann, \(B\) is not substantively rational: Since \(S_{B}(w)=\{O_1I_3\}\), we have
\[Out_B(v_2, O_2, S_{B}(w))=\{o_2\}\]and
\[Out_B(v_2, I_2, S_{B}(w))=\{o_4\};\]and so, \(B\) is not rational at \(v_2\) in \(w\) (note that \(u_B(o_4)=3>1=u_B(o_2)\)). Stalnaker suggests that the players should be endowed with a belief revision policy that describes which informational state they would revert to in case they were to observe moves that are inconsistent with what they know about their opponents’ strategies. If \(B\) does learn that he can in fact move, then he has learned something about \(A\)’s strategy. In particular, he now knows that she cannot be following any strategy that prescribes that she chooses \(O_1\) at \(v_1\) (so, in particular, she cannot be following the strategy \(O_1I_3\).) Suppose that \(B\) is disposed to react to surprising information about \(A\)’s choice of strategy as follows: Upon learning that \(A\) is not following a strategy in which she chooses \(O_1\) at \(v_1\), he concludes that she is following strategy \(I_1O_3\). That is, \(B\)’s “belief revision policy” can be summarized as follows: If \(A\) makes one “irrational move”, then she will make another one. Stalnaker explains the apparent tension between this belief revision policy and his knowledge that if \(A\) where given the opportunity to choose at \(v_3\), then she would choose \(I_3\) as follows:
To think there is something incoherent about this combination of beliefs and belief revision policy is to confuse epistemic with causal counterfactuals—it would be like thinking that because I believe that if Shakespeare hadn’t written Hamlet, it would have never been written by anyone, I must therefore be disposed to conclude that Hamlet was never written, were I to learn that Shakespeare was in fact not its author. (Stalnaker 1996: 152)
Then, with respect to \(B\)’s appropriately updated knowledge about \(A\)’s choice at \(v_3\) (according to his specified belief revision policy), his strategy \(O_2\) is in fact rational. According to Stalnaker, the rationality of a choice at a node \(v\) should be evaluated in the (counterfactual) epistemic state the player would be in if that node was reached. Assuming \(A\) knows that \(B\) is using the belief revision policy described above, then \(A\) knows that \(B\) is substantively rational in Stalnaker’s sense. If the model includes explicit information about the players’ belief revision policy, then there can be common knowledge of substantive rationality (in Stalnaker’s sense) yet the players’ choices do not conform to the backward induction profile.
4.3 Common strong belief and forward induction
In the previous section, we assumed that the players interpret an opponent’s deviation from expected play in an extensive game (e.g., deviation from the backward induction path) as an indication that that player will choose “irrationally” at future decision nodes. However, this is just one example of a belief revision policy. It is not suggested that this is the belief revision policy that players should adopt. Stalnaker’s central claim is that models of extensive games should include a component that describes the players’ disposition to change their beliefs during a play of the game, which may vary from model to model or even among the players in a single model:
Faced with surprising behavior in the course of a game, the players must decide what then to believe. Their strategies will be based on how their beliefs would be revised, which will in turn be based on their epistemic priorities—whether an unexpected action should be regarded as an isolated mistake that is thereby epistemically independent of beliefs about subsequent actions, or whether it reveals, intentionally or inadvertently, something about the player’s expectations, and so about the way she is likely to behave in the future. The players must decide, but the theorists should not—at least they should not try to generalize about epistemic priorities that are meant to apply to any rational agent in all situations. (Stalnaker 1998: 54)
One belief revision policy that has been extensively discussed in the epistemic game theory literature is the rationalizability principle. Battigalli (1997) describes this belief revision policy as follows:
Rationalizability Principle A player should always try to interpret her information about the behavior of her opponents assuming that they are not implementing ‘irrational’ strategies.
This belief revision policy is closely related to socalled forward induction reasoning. To illustrate, consider the following imperfect information game:
Figure 19
In the above game, \(A\) can either exit the game initially (by choosing \(e\)) for a guaranteed payoff of \(2\) or decide to play a game of imperfect information with \(B\). Notice that \(r_1\) is strictly dominated by \(e\): No matter what \(B\) chooses at \(v_3\), \(A\) is better off choosing \(e\). This means that if \(A\) is following a rational strategy, then she will not choose \(r_1\) at \(v_1\). According to the rationalizability principle, \(B\) is disposed to believe that \(A\) did not choose \(r_1\) if he is given a chance to move. Thus, assuming that \(B\) knows the structure of the game and revises his beliefs according to the rationalizability principle, his only rational strategy is to choose \(l_2\) at his informational cell (consisting of \(\{v_2, v_3\})\). If \(A\) can anticipate this reasoning, then her only rational strategy is to choose \(e\) at \(v_1\). This is the forward induction outcome of the above game.
Battigalli & Siniscalchi (2002) develop an epistemic analysis of forward induction reasoning in extensive games (cf. also, Stalnaker 1998: sec. 6). They build on an idea of Stalnaker (1998, 1996) to characterize forward induction solution concepts in terms of common strong belief in rationality. We discussed the definition of “strong belief” in Section 2.4. The mathematical representation of beliefs in Battigalli & Siniscalchi (2002) is different, although the underlying idea is the same. A player strongly believes an event \(E\) provided she believes \(E\) is true at the beginning of the game (in the sense that she assigns probability 1 to \(E\)) and continues to believe \(E\) as long as it is not falsified by the evidence. The evidence available to a player in an extensive game consists of the observations of the previous moves that are consistent with the structure of the game tree—i.e., the paths through a game tree. A complete discussion of this approach is beyond the scope of the entry. Consult Battigalli & Siniscalchi (2002); Baltag et al. (2009); Battigalli & Friedenberg (2012); Bonanno (2013); Perea (2012, 2014); and van Benthem & Gheerbrant (2010) for a discussion of this approach and alternative epistemic analyses of backward and forward induction.
5. Developments
In this section, we present a number of results that build on the methodology presented in the previous section. We discuss the characterization of the Nash equilibrium, incorporate considerations of weak dominance into the players’ reasoning and allow the players to be unaware, as opposed to uncertain, about some aspects of the game.
5.1 Nash Equilibrium
5.1.1 The Result
Iterated elimination of strictly dominated strategies is a very intuitive concept, but for many games it does not tell anything about what the players will or should choose. In coordination games (Figure 1 above) for instance, all profiles, can be played under rationality and common belief of rationality.
Looking again at Figure 1, one can ask what would happen if Bob knew (that is had correct beliefs about) Ann’s strategy choice? Intuitively, it is quite clear that his rational choice is to coordinate with her. If he knows that she plays \(t\), for instance, then playing \(l\) is clearly the only rational choice for him, and similarly, if he knows that she plays \(b\), then \(r\) is the only rational choice. The situation is symmetric for Ann. For instance, if she knows that Bob plays \(l\), then her only rational choice is to choose \(t\). More formally, the only states where Ann is rational and her type knows (i.e., is correct and assigns probability 1 to) Bob’s strategy choice and where Bob is also rational and his type knows Ann’s strategy choices are states where they play either \((t,l)\) or \((b,r)\), the purestrategy Nash equilibria of the game.
A Nash equilibrium is a profile where no player has an incentive to unilaterally deviate from his strategy choice. In other words, a Nash equilibrium is a combination of (possibly mixed) strategies such that they all play their best response given the strategy choices of the others. Again, \((t,l)\) and \((b,r)\) are the only purestrategy equilibria of the above coordination game. Nash equilibrium, and its numerous refinements, is arguably the game theoretical solution concept that has been most used in game theory (Aumann & Hart 1994) and philosophy (e.g., famously in Lewis 1969).
The seminal result of Aumann & Brandenburger 1995 provides an epistemic characterization of the Nash equilibrium in terms of mutual knowledge of strategy choices (and the structure of the game). See, also, Spohn (1982) for an early statement. Before stating the theorem, we discuss an example from Aumann & Brandenburger (1995) that illustrates the key ideas. Consider the following coordination game:
B  
A 

Figure 20
The two purestrategy Nash equilibria are \((u,l)\) and \((d,r)\) (there is also a mixedstrategy equilibrium). As usual, we fix an informational context for this game. Let \(\T\) be a type space for the game with three types for each player \(T_A=\{a_1,a_2, a_3\}\) and \(T_B=\{b_1,b_2,b_3\}\) with the following type functions:




\(\lambda_A(a_1)\)  \(\lambda_A(a_2)\)  \(\lambda_A(a_3)\) 




\(\lambda_B(b_1)\)  \(\lambda_B(b_2)\)  \(\lambda_B(b_3)\) 
Figure 21
Consider the state \((d,r,a_3,b_3)\). Both \(a_3\) and \(b_3\) correctly believe (i.e., assign probability 1 to) that the outcome is \((d,r)\) (we have \(\lambda_A(a_3)(r)=\lambda_B(b_3)(d)=1\)). This fact is not common knowledge: \(a_3\) assigns a 0.5 probability to Bob being of type \(b_2\), and type \(b_2\) assigns a 0.5 probability to Ann playing \(l\). Thus, Ann does not know that Bob knows that she is playing \(r\) (here, “knowledge” is identified with “probability 1” as it is in Aumann & Brandenburger 1995). Furthermore, while it is true that both Ann and Bob are rational, it is not common knowledge that they are rational. Indeed, the type \(a_3\) assigns a 0.5 probability to Bob being of type \(b_2\) and choosing \(r\); however, this is irrational since \(b_2\) believes that both of Ann’s options are equally probable.
The example above is a situation where there is mutual knowledge of the choices of the players. Indeed, it is not hard to see that in any type space for a 2player game \(G\), if \((s,t)\) is a state where there is mutual knowledge that player \(i\) is choosing \(s_i\) and the players are rational, then, \(s\) constitutes a (purestrategy) Nash Equilibrium. There is a more general theorem concerning mixed strategy equilibrium. Recall that a conjecture for player \(i\) is a probability measure over the strategy choices of her opponents.
Theorem 5.1 (Aumann & Brandenburger 1995: Theorem A) Suppose that \(G\) is a 2person strategic game, \((p_1,p_2)\) are conjectures for players 1 and 2, and \(\T\) is a type space for \(G\). If \((s,t)\) is a state in \(\T\) where for \(i=1,2\), \(t_i\) assigns probability 1 to the events (a) both players are rational (i.e., maximize expected utility), (b) the game is \(G\) and (c) for \(i=1,2\), player \(i\)’s conjecture is \(p_i\), then \((p_1, p_2)\) constitutes a Nash equilibrium.
The general version of this result, for arbitrary finite number of agents and allowing for mixed strategies, requires common knowledge of conjectures, i.e., of each player’s probabilistic beliefs in the other’s choices. See Aumann & Brandenburger (1995: Theorem B) for precise formulation of the result, and, again, Spohn (1982) for an early version. See, also, Perea (2007) and Tan & Werlang (1988) for similar results about the Nash equilibrium.
5.1.2 Philosophical Issues
This epistemic characterization of Nash equilibrium requires mutual knowledge and rather than beliefs. The result fails when agents can be mistaken about the strategy choice of the others. This has lead some authors to criticize this epistemic characterization: See Gintis (2009) and Bruin (2010), for instance. How could the players ever know what the others are choosing? Is it not contrary to the very idea of a game, where the players are free to choose whatever they want (Baltag et al. 2009)?
One popular response to this criticism (Brandenburger 2010; Perea 2012) is that the above result tells us something about Nash equilibrium as a solution concept, namely that it alleviates strategic uncertainty. Indeed, returning to the terminology introduced in Section 1.3, the epistemic conditions for Nash equilibrium are those that correspond to the ex post state of information disclosure, “when all is said and done”, to put it figuratively. When players have reached full knowledge of what the others are going to do, there is nothing left to think about regarding the other players as rational, deliberating agents. The consequences of each of the players’ actions are now certain. The only task that remains is to compute which action is recommended by the adopted choice rule, and this does not involve any specific information about the other players’ beliefs. Their choices are fixed, after all.
The idea here is not to reject the epistemic characterization of Nash Equilibrium on the grounds that it rests on unrealistic assumptions, but, rather, to view it as a lesson learned about Nash Equilibrium itself. From an epistemic point of view, where one is focused on strategic reasoning about what others are going to do and are thinking, this solution concepts might be of less interest.
There is another important lesson to draw from this epistemic characterization result. The widespread idea that game theory “assumes common knowledge of rationality”, perhaps in conjunction with the extensive use of equilibrium concepts in gametheoretic analysis, has lead to misconception that the Nash Equilibrium either requires common knowledge of rationality, or that common knowledge of rationality is sufficient for the players to play according to a Nash equilibrium. To be sure, game theoretic models do assume that the structure of the game is common knowledge (though, see Section 5.3). Nonetheless, the above result shows that both of these ideas are incorrect:
Common knowledge of rationality is neither necessary nor sufficient for Nash Equilibrium.
In fact, as we just stressed, Nash equilibrium can be played under full uncertainty, and a fortiori under higherorder uncertainty, about the rationality of others.
5.1.3 Remarks on “Modal” Characterizations of Nash Equilibrium
In recent years, a number of socalled “modal” characterizations of Nash Equilibrium have been proposed, mostly using techniques from modal logic (see Hoek & Pauly 2007 for details). These results typically devise a modal logical language to describe games in strategic form, typically including modalities for the players’ actions and preference, and show that the notion of profile being a Nash Equilibrium language is definable in such a language.
Most of these characterizations are not epistemic, and thus fall outside the scope of this entry. In context of this entry, it is important to note that most of these results aim at something different than the epistemic characterization which we are discussing in this section. Mostly developed in Computer Sciences, these logical languages have been used to verify properties of multiagents systems, not to provide epistemic foundations to this solution concept. However, note that in recent years, a number of logical characterizations of Nash equilibrium do explicitly use epistemic concepts (see, for example, van Benthem et al. 2009; Lorini & Schwarzentruber 2010).
5.2 Incorporating Admissibility and “Cautious” Beliefs
It is not hard to find a game and an informational context where there is at least one player without a unique “rational choice”. How should a rational player incorporate the information that more than one action is classified as “choiceworthy” or “rationally permissible” (according to some choice rule) for her opponent(s)? In such a situation, it is natural to require that the player does not rule out the possibility that her opponent will pick a “choiceworthy” option. More generally, the players should be “cautious” about which of their opponents’ options they rule out.
Assuming that the players’ beliefs are “cautious” is naturally related to weak dominance (recall the characterization of weak dominance, Section 3.2 in which a strategy is weakly dominated iff it does not maximize expected utility with respect to any full support probability measure). A key issue in epistemic game theory is the epistemic analysis of iterated removal of weakly dominated strategies. Many authors have pointed out puzzles surrounding such an analysis (Asheim & Dufwenberg 2003; Brandenburger, Friedenberg & Keisler 2008; Cubitt & Sugden 1994; Samuelson 1992). For example, Samuelson (1992) showed (among other things) that the analogue of Theorem 4.1 is not true for iterated removal of weakly dominated strategies. The main problem is illustrated by the following game:
Bob  
Ann 

Figure 22
In the above game, \(d\) is weakly dominated by \(u\) for Ann. If Bob knows that Ann is rational (in the sense that she will not choose a weakly dominated strategy), then he can rule out option \(d\). In the smaller game, action \(r\) is now strictly dominated by \(l\) for Bob. If Ann knows that Bob is rational and that Bob knows that she is rational (and so, rules out option \(d\)), then she can rule out option \(r\). Assuming that the above reasoning is transparent to both Ann and Bob, it is common knowledge that Ann will play \(u\) and Bob will play \(l\). But now, what is the reason for Bob to rule out the possibility that Ann will play \(d\)? He knows that Ann knows that he is going to play \(l\) and both \(u\) and \(d\) are best responses to \(l\). The problem is that assuming that the players’ beliefs are cautious conflicts with the logic of iterated removal of weakly dominated strategies. This issue is nicely described in a wellknown microeconomics textbook:
[T]he argument for deletion of a weakly dominated strategy for player \(i\) is that he contemplates the possibility that every strategy combination of his rivals occurs with positive probability. However, this hypothesis clashes with the logic of iterated deletion, which assumes, precisely that eliminated strategies are not expected to occur. (MasColell, Winston, & Green 1995: 240)
The extent of this conflict is nicely illustrated in Samuelson (1992). In particular, Samuelson (1992) shows that there is no epistemicprobability model^{[14]} of the above game with a state satisfying common knowledge of rationality (where “rationality” means that players do not choose weakly dominated strategies). Prima facie, this is puzzling: What about the epistemicprobability model consisting of a single state \(w\) assigned the profile \((u, l)\)? Isn’t this a model of the above game where there is a state satisfying common knowledge that the players do not choose weakly dominated strategies? The problem is that the players do not have “cautious” beliefs in this model (in particular, Bob’s beliefs are not cautious in the sense described below). Recall that having a cautious belief means that a player cannot know which options her opponent(s) will pick^{[15]} from a set of choiceworthy options (in the above game, if Ann knows that Bob is choosing \(l\), then both \(u\) and \(d\) are “choiceworthy”, so Bob cannot know that Ann is choosing \(u\)). This suggests an additional requirement on a game model: Let \(\M=\epprobmodel\) be an epistemicprobability model. For each action \(a\in \cup_{i\in\Agt} S_i\), let \({[\![{a}]\!]}=\{w \mid (\sigma(w))_i=a\}\).
If \(a\in S_i\) is rational for player \(i\) at state \(w\), then for all players \(j\ne i\), \({[\![{a}]\!]}\cap \Pi_j(w)\ne \emptyset\).
This means that a player cannot know that her opponent will not choose an action at a state \(w\) which is deemed rational (according to some choice rule). This property is called “privacy of tiebreaking” by Cubitt and Sugden (2011: 8) and “no extraneous beliefs” by Asheim and Dufwenberg (2003).^{[16]} For an extended discussion of the above assumption see Cubitt & Sugden (2011).
Given the above considerations, the epistemic analysis of iterated weak dominance is not a straightforward adaptation of the analysis of iterated strict dominance discussed in the previous section. In particular, any such analysis must resolve the conflict between strategic reasoning where players rule out certain strategy choices of their opponent(s) and admissibility considerations where players must consider all of their opponents’ options possible. A number of authors have developed frameworks that do resolve this conflict (Brandenburger et al. 2008; Asheim & Dufwenberg 2003; Halpern & Pass 2009). We sketch one of these solutions below:
The key idea is to represent the players’ beliefs as a lexicographic probability system (LPS). An LPS is a finite sequence of probability measures \((p_1,p_2,\ldots,p_n)\) with supports (The support of a probability measure \(p\) defined on a set of states \(W\) is the set of all states that have nonzero probability; formally, \(Supp(p)=\{w \mid p(w)>0\}\)) that do not overlap. This is interpreted as follows: if \((p_1,\ldots,p_n)\) represents Ann’s beliefs, then \(p_1\) is Ann’s “initial hypothesis” about what Bob is going to do, \(p_2\) is Ann’s secondary hypothesis, and so on. In the above game, we can describe Bob’s beliefs as follows: his initial hypothesis is that Ann will choose \(U\) with probability 1 and his secondary hypothesis is that she will choose \(D\) with probability 1. The interpretation is that, although Bob does not rule out the possibility that Ann will choose \(D\) (i.e., choose irrationally), he does consider it infinitely less likely than her choosing \(U\) (i.e., choosing rationally).
So, representing beliefs as lexicographic probability measures resolves the conflict between strategic reasoning and the assumption that players do not play weakly dominated strategies. However, there is another, more fundamental, issue that arises in the epistemic analysis of iterated weak dominance:
Under admissibility, Ann considers everything possible. But this is only a decisiontheoretic statement. Ann is in a game, so we imagine she asks herself: “What about Bob? What does he consider possible?” If Ann truly considers everything possible, then it seems she should, in particular, allow for the possibility that Bob does not! Alternatively put, it seems that a full analysis of the admissibility requirement should include the idea that other players do not conform to the requirement. (Brandenburger et al. 2008: 313)
There are two main ingredients to the epistemic characterization of iterated weak dominance. The first is to represent the players’ beliefs as lexicographic probability systems. The second is to use a stronger notion of belief: A player assumes an event \(E\) provided \(E\) is infinitely more likely than \(\overline{E}\) (on finite spaces, this means each state in \(E\) is infinitely more likely than states not in \(E\)). The key question is: What is the precise relationship between the event “rationality and common assumption of rationality” and the strategies that survive iterated removal of weakly dominated strategies? The precise answer turns out to be surprisingly subtle—the details are beyond the scope of this article (see Brandenburger et al. 2008).
5.3 Incorporating Unawareness
The game models introduced in Section 2 have been used to describe the uncertainty that the players have about what their opponents are going to do and are thinking in a game situation. In the analyses provided thus far, the structure of the game (i.e., who is playing, what are the preferences of the different players, and which actions are available) is assumed to be common knowledge among the players. However, there are many situations where the players do not have such complete information about the game. There is no inherent difficulty in using the models from Section 2 to describe situations where players are not perfectly informed about the structure of the game (for example, where there is some uncertainty about available actions).
There is, however, a foundational issue that arises here. Suppose that Ann considers it impossible that her opponent will choose action \(a\). Now, there are many reasons why Ann would hold such an opinion. On the one hand, Ann may know something about what her opponent is going to do or is thinking which allows her to rule out action \(a\) as a live possibility—i.e., given all the evidence Ann has about her opponent, she concludes that action \(a\) is just not something her opponent will do. On the other hand, Ann may not even conceive of the possibility that her opponent will choose action \(a\). She may have a completely different model of the game in mind than her opponents. The foundational question is: Can the game models introduced in Section 2 faithfully represent this latter type of uncertainty?
The question is not whether one can formally describe what Ann knows and believes under the assumption that she considers it impossible that her opponent will choose action \(a\). Indeed, an epistemicprobability model where Ann assigns probability zero to the event that her opponent chooses action \(a\) is a perfectly good description of Ann’s epistemic state. The problem is that this model blurs an important distinction between Ann being unaware that action \(a\) is a live possibility and Ann ruling out that action \(a\) is a viable option for her opponent. This distinction is illustrated by the following snippet from the wellknown Sherlock Holmes’ short story Silver Blaze (Doyle 1894):
…I saw by the inspector’s face that his attention had been keenly aroused.
“You consider that to be important?” he [Inspector Gregory] asked.
“Exceedingly so.”
“Is there any point to which you would wish to draw my attention?”
“To the curious incident of the dog in the nighttime.”
“The dog did nothing in the nighttime.”
“That was the curious incident,” remarked Sherlock Holmes.
The point is that Holmes is aware of a particular event (“the dog not barking”) and uses this to come to a conclusion. The inspector is not aware of this event, and so cannot (without Holmes’ help) come to the same conclusion. This is true of many detective stories: clever detectives not only have the ability to “connect the dots”, but they are also aware of which dots need to be connected. Can we describe the inspector’s unawareness in an epistemic model?^{[17]}
Suppose that \(U_i(E)\) is the event that the player \(i\) is unaware of the event \(E\). Of course, if \(i\) is unaware of \(E\) then \(i\) does not know that \(E\) is true (\(U_i(E)\subseteq \overline{K_i(E)}\), where \(\overline{X}\) denotes the complement of the event \(X\)). Recall that in epistemic models (where the players’ information is described by partitions), we have the negative introspection property:
\[\overline{K_i(E)}\subseteq K_i(\overline{K_i(E)}).\]This means that if \(i\) is unaware of \(E\), then \(i\) knows that she does not know that \(E\). Thus, to capture a more natural definition of \(U_i(E)\) where
\[U_i(E) \subseteq \overline{K_i(E)} \cap \overline{K_i(\overline{K_i(E)})},\]we need to represent the players’ knowledge in a possibility structure where the \(K_i\) operators do not necessarily satisfy negative introspection. A possibility structure is a tuple \(\langle W, \{P_i\}_{i\in\A}, \sigma\rangle\) where \(P_i:W\rightarrow \pow(W)\). The only difference with an epistemic model is that the \(P_i(w)\) do not necessarily form a partition of \(W\). We do not go into details here—see Halpern (1999) for a complete discussion of possibility structures and how they relate to epistemic models. The knowledge operator is defined as it is for epistemic models: for each event \(E\), \(K_i(E)=\{w \mid P_i(w)\subseteq E\}\). However, S. Modica and A. Rustichini (1994, 1999) argue that even the more general possibility structures cannot be used to describe a player’s unawareness.
A natural definition of unawareness on possibility structures is:
\[U(E) = \overline{K(E)} \cap \overline{K(\overline{K(E)})} \cap \overline{K(\overline{K(\overline{K(E)})}}\cap \cdots \]That is, an agent is unaware of \(E\) provided the agent does not know that \(E\) obtains, does not know that she does not know that \(E\) obtains, and so on. Modica and Rustichini use a variant of the above Sherlock Holmes story to show that there is a problem with this definition of unawareness.
Suppose there are two signals: A dog barking (\(d\)) and a cat howling (\(c\)). Furthermore, suppose there are three states \(w_1\), \(w_2\) in which the dog barks and \(w_3\) in which the cat howls. The event that there is no intruder is \(E=\{w_1\}\) (the lack of the two signals indicates that there was no intruder^{[18]}). The following possibility structure (where there is an arrow from state \(w\) to state \(v\) provided \(v\in P(w)\)) describes the inspector’s epistemic state:
Figure 23
Consider the following calculations:
\(K(E)=\{w_2\}\) (at \(w_2\), Watson knows there is a human intruder) and \(K(E)=\{w_1,w_3\}\)
\(K(K(E))=\{w_3\}\) (at \(w_3\), Watson knows that she does not know \(E\)), and \(K(K(E))=\{w_1,w_2\}\).
\(K(E)\cap K(K(E))=\{w_1\}\) and, in fact, \(\bigcap_{i=1}^\infty (K)^i(E)=\{w_1\}\)
Let \(U(F)=\bigcap_{i=1}^\infty (K)^i(F)\). Then,
\(U(\emptyset)=U(W)=U(\{w_1\})=U(\{w_2,w_3\})=\emptyset\)
\(U(E)=U(\{w_3\})=U(\{w_1,w_3\})=U(\{w_1,w_2\}=\{w_1\}\)
So, \(U(E)=\{w_1\}\) and \(U(U(E))=U(\{w_1\})=\emptyset\). This means that at state \(w_1\), the Inspector is unaware of \(E\), but is not unaware that he is unaware of \(E\). More generally, Dekel et al. (1998) show that there is no nontrivial unawareness operator \(U\) satisfying the following properties:
\(U(E) \subseteq \overline{K(E)}\cap \overline{K(E)}\)
\(K(U(E))=\emptyset\)
\(U(E)\subseteq U(U(E))\)
There is an extensive literature devoted to developing models that can represent the players’ unawareness. See Board, Chung, & Schipper (2011); Chen, Ely, & Luo (2012); E. Dekel et al. (1998); Halpern (2001a); Halpern & Rego (2008); and Heifetz, Meier, & Schipper (2006) for a discussion of issues related to this entry. The Unawareness Bibliography (see Other Internet Resources) has an uptodate list of papers in this area.
6. A Paradox of SelfReference in Game Models
The first step in any epistemic analysis of a game is to describe the players’ knowledge and beliefs using (a possible variant of) one of the models introduced in Section 2. As we noted already in Section 2.2, there will be statements about what the players know and believe about the game situation and about each other that are commonly known in some models but not in others.
In any particular structure, certain beliefs, beliefs about belief, …, will be present and others won’t be. So, there is an important implicit assumption behind the choice of a structure. This is that it is “transparent” to the players that the beliefs in the type structure—and only those beliefs—are possible ….The idea is that there is a “context” to the strategic situation (e.g., history, conventions, etc.) and this “context” causes the players to rule out certain beliefs. (Brandenburger & Friedenberg 2010: 801)
Ruling out certain configurations of beliefs constitute substantive assumptions about the players’ reasoning during the decision making process. In other words, substantive assumptions are about how, and how much, information is imparted to the agents, over and above those that are intrinsic to the mathematical formulation of the structures used to describe the players’ information. It is not hard to see that one always finds substantive assumptions in finite structures: Given a countably infinite set of atomic propositions, for instance, in finite structures it will always be common knowledge that some logically consistent combination of these basic facts are not realized, and a fortiori for logically consistent configurations of information and higherorder information about these basic facts. On the other hand, monotonicity of the belief/knowledge operator is a typical example of an assumption that is not substantive. More generally, there are no models of games, as we defined in Section 2, where it is not common knowledge that the players believe all the logical consequences of their beliefs.^{[19]}
Can we compare models in terms of the number of substantive assumptions that are made? Are there models that make no, or at least as few as possible, substantive assumptions? These questions have been extensively discussed in the epistemic foundations of game theory—see the discussion in Samuelson (1992) and the references in Moscati (2009). Intuitively, a structure without any substantive assumptions must represent all possible states of (higherorder) information. Whether such a structure exists will depend, in part, on how the players’ informational attitudes are represented—e.g., as (conditional/lexicographic) probability measures or setvalued knowledge/belief functions. These questions have triggered interest in the existence of “rich” models containing most, if not all, possible configurations of (higherorder) knowledge and beliefs.
There are different ways to understand what it means for a structure to minimize the substantive assumptions about the players’ higherorder information. We do not attempt a complete overview of this interesting literature here (see Brandenburger & Keisler (2006: sec. 11) and Siniscalchi (2008: sec. 3) for discussion and pointers to the relevant results). One approach considers the space of all (Harsanyi type/Kripke/epistemicplausibility) structures and tries to find a single structure that, in some suitable sense, “contains” all other structures. Such a structure, often called called a universal structure (or a terminal object in the language of category theory), if it exists, incorporates any substantive assumption that an analyst can imagine. Such structure have been shown to exists for Harsanyi type spaces (Mertens & Zamir 1985; Brandenburger & Dekel 1993). For Kripke structures, the question has been answered in the negative (Heifetz & Samet 1998; Fagin, Geanakoplos, Halpern, & Vardi 1999; Meier 2005), with some qualifications regarding the language that is used to describe them (Heifetz 1999; Roy & Pacuit 2013).
A second approach takes an internal perspective by asking whether, for a fixed set of states or types, the agents are making any substantive assumptions about what their opponents know or believe. The idea is to identify (in a given model) a set of possible conjectures about the players. For example, in a knowledge structure based on a set of states \(W\) this might be the set of all subsets of \(W\) or the set definable subsets of \(W\) in some suitable logical language. A space is said to be complete if each agent correctly takes into account each possible conjecture about her opponents. A simple counting argument shows that there cannot exist a complete structure when the set of conjectures is all subsets of the set of states (Brandenburger 2003). However, there is a deeper result here which we discuss below.
The BrandenburgerKeisler Paradox
Adam Brandenburger and H. Jerome Keisler (2006) introduce the following two person, Russelstyle paradox. The statement of the paradox involves two concepts: beliefs and assumptions. An assumption is a player’s strongest belief: it is a set of states that implies all other beliefs at a given state. We will say more about the interpretation of an assumption below. Suppose there are two players, Ann and Bob, and consider the following description of beliefs.
 (S) Ann believes that Bob assumes that Ann believes that Bob’s assumption is wrong.
A paradox arises by asking the question
 (Q) Does Ann believe that Bob’s assumption is wrong?
To ease the discussion, let \(C\) be Bob’s assumption in (S): that is, \(C\) is the statement “Ann believes that Bob’s assumption is wrong.” So, (Q) asks whether \(C\) is true or false. We will argue that \(C\) is true if, and only if, \(C\) is false.
Suppose that \(C\) is true. Then, Ann does believe that Bob’s assumption is wrong, and, by introspection, she believes that she believes this. That is to say, Ann believes that \(C\) is correct. Furthermore, according to (S), Ann believes that Bob’s assumption is \(C\). So, Ann, in fact, believes that Bob’s assumption is correct (she believes Bob’s assumption is \(C\) and that \(C\) is correct). So, \(C\) is false.
Suppose that \(C\) is false. This means that Ann believes that Bob’s assumption is correct. That is, Ann believes that \(C\) is correct (By (S), Ann believes that Bob’s assumption is \(C\)). Furthermore, by (S), we have that Ann believes that Bob assumes that Ann believes that \(C\) is wrong. So, Ann believes that she believes that \(C\) is correct and she believes that Bob assumption is that she believes that \(C\) is wrong. So, it is true that she believes Bob’s assumptions is wrong (Ann believes that Bob’s assumption is she believes that \(C\) is wrong, but she believes that is wrong: she believes that \(C\) is correct). So, \(C\) is true.
Brandenburger and Keisler formalize the above argument in order to prove a very strong impossibility result about the existence of socalled assumptioncomplete structures. We need some notation to state this result. It will be most convenient to work in qualitative type spaces for two players (Definition 2.7). A qualitative type space for two players (cf. Definition 2.7. The set of states is not important in what follows, so we leave it out) is a structure \(\langle \{T_A, T_B\}, \{\lambda_A, \lambda_B\}\rangle\) where
\[\lambda_A:T_A\rightarrow \pow(T_B)\qquad\lambda_B:T_B\rightarrow\pow(T_A)\]A set of conjectures about Ann is a subset \(\C_A\subseteq \pow(T_A)\) (similarly, the set of conjectures about Bob is a subset \(\C_B\subseteq \pow(T_B)\)). A structure \(\langle \{T_A, T_B\}, \{\lambda_A, \lambda_B\}\rangle\) is said to be assumptioncomplete for the conjectures \(\C_A\) and \(\C_B\) provided for each conjecture in \(\C_A\) there is a type that assumes that conjecture (similarly for Bob). Formally, for each \(Y\in\C_B\) there is a \(t_0\in T_A\) such that \(\lambda_A(t_0)=Y\), and similarly for Bob. As we remarked above, a simple counting argument shows that when \(\C_A=\pow(T_A)\) and \(\C_B=\pow(T_B)\), then assumptioncomplete models only exist in trivial cases. A much deeper result is:
Theorem 6.1 (Brandenburger & Keisler 2006: Theorem 5.4) There is no assumptioncomplete type structure for the set of conjectures that contains the firstorder definable subsets.
See the supplement for a discussion of the proof of this theorem (see Section 2).
Consult Pacuit (2007) and Abramsky & Zvesper (2010) for an extensive analysis and generalization of this result. But, it is not all bad news: Mariotti, Meier, & Piccione (2005) construct a complete structure where the set of conjectures are compact subsets of some wellbehaved topological space.
7. Concluding Remarks
The epistemic view on games is that players should be seen as individual decision makers, choosing what to do on the basis of their own preferences and the information they have in specific informational contexts. What decision they will make—the descriptive question—or what decision they should make—the normative question, depends on the decisiontheoretic choice rule that the player use, or should use, in a given context. We conclude with two general methodological issues about epistemic game theory and some pointers to further reading.
7.1 What is an epistemic game theory trying to accomplish?
Common knowledge of rationality is an informal assumption that game theorists, philosophers and other social scientists often appeal to when analyzing social interactive situations. The epistemic program in game theory demonstrates that there are many ways to understand what exactly it means to assume that there is “common knowledge/belief of rationality” in a game situation.
Broadly speaking, much of the epistemic game theory literature is focused on two types of projects. The goal of the first project is to map out the relationship between different mathematical representations of what the players know and believe about each other in a game situation. Research along these lines not only raises interesting technical questions about how to compare and contrast different mathematical models of the players’ epistemic states, but it also highlights the benefits and limits of an epistemic analysis of games. The second project addresses the nature of rational choice in game situations. The importance of this project is nicely explained by Wolfgang Spohn:
…game theory…is, to put it strongly, confused about the rationality concept appropriate to it, its assumptions about its subjects (the players) are very unclear, and, as a consequence, it is unclear about the decision rules to be applied….The basic difficulty in defining rational behavior in game situations is the fact that in general each player’s strategy will depend on his expectations about the other players’ strategies. Could we assume that his expectations were given, then his problem of strategy choice would become an ordinary maximization problem: he could simply choose a strategy maximizing his own payoff on the assumption that the other players would act in accordance with his given expectations. But the point is that game theory cannot regard the players’ expectations about each other’s behavior as given; rather, one of the most important problems for game theory is precisely to decide what expectations intelligent players can rationally entertain about other intelligent players’ behavior. (Spohn 1982: 267)
Much of the work in epistemic game theory can be viewed as an attempt to use precise representations of the players’ knowledge and beliefs to help resolve some of the confusion alluded to in the above quote.
7.2 Alternatives to maximizing expected utility
In an epistemic analysis of a game, the specific recommendations or predictions for the players’ choices are derived from decisiontheoretic choice rules. Maximization of expected utility, for instance, underlies most of the results in the contemporary literature on the epistemic foundations of game theory. From a methodological perspective, however, the choice rule that the modeler assumes the players are following is simply a parameter that can be varied. In recent years, there have been some initial attempts to develop epistemic analyses with alternative choice rules, for instance minregret Halpern & Pass (2009).
7.3 Further reading
The reader interested in more extensive coverage of all or some of the topics discussed in this entry should consult the following articles and books.
Logic in Games by Johan van Benthem: This book uses the tools of modal logic broadly conceived to discuss many of the issues raised in this entry (2014, MIT Press).
The Language of Game Theory by Adam Brandenburger: A collection of Brandenburger’s key papers on epistemic game theory (2014, World Scientific Series in Economic Theory).
Epistemic Game Theory by Eddie Dekel and Marciano Siniscalchi: A survey paper aimed at economists covering the main technical results of epistemic game theory (2014, Available online).
Epistemic Game Theory: Reasoning and Choice by Andrés Perea: A nontechnical introduction to epistemic game theory (2012, Cambridge University Press).
The Bounds of Reason: Game Theory and the Unification of the Behavioral Sciences by Herbert Gintis: This book offers a broad overview of the social and behavioral science using the ideas of epistemic game theory (2009, Princeton University Press).
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Acknowledgments
The editors would like to thank Philippe van Basshuysen for reading this entry carefully and taking the time to inform us of a significant number of typographical errors.