# Formal Representations of Belief

*First published Wed Oct 22, 2008; substantive revision Mon Jan 11, 2016*

Epistemology is the study of knowledge and justified belief. Belief is thus central to epistemology. It comes in a qualitative form, as when Sophia believes that Vienna is the capital of Austria, and a quantitative form, as when Sophia’s degree of belief that Vienna is the capital of Austria is at least twice her degree of belief that tomorrow it will be sunny in Vienna. Formal epistemology, as opposed to mainstream epistemology (Hendricks 2006), is epistemology done in a formal way, that is, by employing tools from logic and mathematics. The goal of this entry is to give the reader an overview of the formal tools available to epistemologists for the representation of belief. A particular focus will be on the relation between formal representations of qualitative belief and formal representations of quantitative degrees of belief.

- 1. Preliminaries
- 2. Subjective Probability Theory
- 3. Other Accounts
- Bibliography
- Academic Tools
- Other Internet Resources
- Related Entries

## 1. Preliminaries

### 1.1 Formal Epistemology versus Mainstream Epistemology

One can ask many questions about belief and the relation between
belief and degrees of belief. Many of them can be asked and answered
informally as well as formally. None of them can be asked or answered
only informally in the sense that it would be *logically*
impossible to ask or answer them formally — although it is, of
course, often impossible *for us* to do so. Just think of how
you would come up with a counterexample to the claim that some
questions can be asked or answered only informally. You would list
objects, and properties of these, and maybe even relations between
them. But then you already have your formal model of the situation you
are talking about. On the other hand, some epistemological questions
can only be answered formally, as is illustrated by the following
example (modeled after one given by Sven Ove Hansson in Hendricks
& Simons 2005).

Consider the following two proposals for a link between the
qualitative notion of belief and the quantitative notion of degree of
belief. According to the first proposal an agent should believe a
proposition if and only if her degree of belief that the proposition
is true is higher than her degree of belief that the proposition is
false (Weatherson 2005). According to the second proposal (known as
the *Lockean thesis* and discussed in section 2.6) an agent
should believe a proposition if and only if her degree of belief for
this proposition is higher than a certain threshold. We can ask
formally as well as, maybe, informally under which conditions these
two proposals are equivalent. However, we can answer this question
only formally.

This provides one reason why we should care about *formal*
representations of belief, and *formal* epistemology in
general. For different reasons why formal epistemology is important
see Hájek (2006).

### 1.2 The Objects of Belief

Before we can investigate the relation between various beliefs and
degrees of belief, we have to get clear about the relata of the
(degree of) belief relation. Belief is commonly assumed to be a
relation between a doxastic agent at a particular time to an object of
belief. Degree of belief is commonly assumed to be a relation between
a number, a doxastic agent at a particular time, and an object of
belief. For the purposes of this entry we may focus on ideal doxastic
agents who do not suffer from the computational and other physical
limitations of ordinary doxastic agents such as people and computer
programs. These ideal doxastic agents get to voluntarily decide what
to believe (and to what degree of numerical precision); they never
forget any of their (degrees of) beliefs; and they always believe
believe all logical and conceptual truths (to a maximal degree). We
may define an agent to be *ideal* just in case any action that
is physically possible is an action that is possible for her. Such
ideal agents ought to do exactly that which they ought to do if they
could, where the ‘can’ in ‘could’ expresses
possibility for the agent, not metaphysical possibility.

It is difficult to state what the objects of belief are. Are they
sentences, or propositions expressed by sentences, or possible worlds
(whatever these are: see Stalnaker 2003), or something altogether
different? The received view is that the objects of belief are
*propositions*, i.e., sets of *possible worlds* or truth
conditions. A more refined view is that the possible worlds comprised
by those propositions are *centered* at an (ideal doxastic)
agent at a given time (for an overview see Ninan 2010). Whereas a(n)
(uncentered) possible world completely specifies a way the world might
be, a centered possible world additionally specifies who one is when
in a given (uncentered) possible world. In the latter case
propositions are often called *properties*. Most
epistemologists stay very general and assume only that there is a
non-empty set \(W\) of possibilities such that exactly one element of
\(W\) corresponds to the actual world. If the possibilities in \(W\)
are centered, the assumption is that there is exactly one element of
\(W\) that corresponds to your current time slice in the actual world
(Lewis 1986 holds that this element not merely corresponds to, but is
identical with, your current time slice in the actual world).

Centered propositions are needed to adequately represent self-locating
beliefs such as Sophia’s belief that she lives in Vienna, which
may well be different from her belief that Sophia lives in Vienna
(these two beliefs differ if Sophia does not believe that she is
Sophia). Self-locating beliefs have important epistemological
consequences (Elga 2000, Lewis 2001, Bostrom 2007, Meacham 2008,
Bradley 2012, Titelbaum 2013, Halpern 2015), and centered propositions
are ably argued by Egan (2006) to correspond to what philosophers have
traditionally called *secondary qualities* (Locke 1690/1975).
Lewis’ (1979, 133ff) claim that the difference between centered
and uncentered propositions plays little role in how belief and other
attitudes are formally represented, and postulated to behave in a
rational way, can only be upheld for synchronic constraints on the
statics of belief. For diachronic constraints on the dynamics of
belief this claim is false, because the actual centered world (your
current time slice in the actual uncentered world) is continually
changing as time goes by. We will bracket these complications, though,
and assume that, unless noted otherwise, the difference between
centered and uncentered possibilities and propositions has no effect
on the topic at issue.

### 1.3 The Structure of the Objects of Belief

Propositions have a certain set-theoretic structure. The set of all
possibilities, \(W\), is a proposition. Furthermore, if \(A\) and
\(B\) are propositions, then so are the complement of \(A\) with
respect to \(W, W \setminus A\), as well as the intersection of \(A\)
and \(B, A\cap B\). In other words, the set of propositions is a
(finitary) *field* or *algebra* \(\mathbf{A}\) over a
non-empty set \(W\) of possibilities: a set that contains \(W\) and is
closed under complementation and finite intersection. Sometimes the
field \(\mathbf{A}\) of propositions is assumed to be closed not only
under finite, but also under countable intersection. This means that
\(A_{1}\cap \ldots A_{n} \cap \ldots\) is a proposition (an element of
\(\mathbf{A})\), if each of \(A_{1},\ldots, A_{n}, \ldots\) is. Such a
field \(\mathbf{A}\) is called a \(\sigma\)*-field*. Finally, a
field \(\mathbf{A}\) is *complete* just in case the
intersection \(\bigcap \bB = \bigcap_{A\in \bB}A\) is in
\(\mathbf{A}\), for each subset \(\bB\) of \(\mathbf{A}\).

If Sophia believes today (to degree .55) that tomorrow it will be
sunny in Vienna, but she does not believe today (to degree .55) that
tomorrow it will not be not sunny in Vienna, propositions cannot be
the objects of Sophia’s (degrees of) belief(s) today. That
tomorrow it will be sunny in Vienna and that tomorrow it will not be
not sunny in Vienna is one and the same proposition (if stated by the
same agent at the same time). It is merely expressed by two different,
but logically equivalent sentences. (Some philosophers think that
propositions are too coarse-grained as objects of belief, while
sentences are too fine-grained. They take the objects of belief to be
*structured propositions*. These are usually taken to be more
fine-grained than ordinary propositions, but less fine-grained than
sentences. For an overview see the entry on
structured propositions.
Other philosophers think that ordinary propositions are just fine,
but that they should be viewed as sets of *epistemic* or
*doxastic* rather than *metaphysical* or
*logical* possibilities.)

Sometimes sentences of a formal language \(\mathbf{L}\) are taken to be the objects of belief. In this case the above mentioned set-theoretic structure translates into the following requirements: the tautological sentence \(\top\) is a sentence of the language \(\mathbf{L}\); and whenever \(\alpha\) and \(\beta\) are sentences of \(\mathbf{L}\), then so are the negation of \(\alpha\), \(\neg \alpha\), as well as the conjunction of \(\alpha\) and \(\beta\), \(alpha \wedge \beta\). However, as long as logically equivalent sentences are required to be assigned the same degree of belief — and all accounts considered here require this — the difference between taking the objects of beliefs to be sentences of a formal language \(\mathbf{L}\) and taking them to be propositions from a finitary field \(\mathbf{A}\) is mainly cosmetic. The reason is that each language \(\mathbf{L}\) induces a finitary field \(\mathbf{A}\) over the set of all models or classical truth value assignments for \(\mathbf{L}\), \(Mod_{\mathbf{L}}\): \(\mathbf{A}\) is the set of propositions over \(Mod_{\mathbf{L}}\) that are expressed by the sentences in \(\mathbf{L}\). \(\mathbf{A}\) in turn induces a unique \(\sigma\)-field, viz. the smallest \(\sigma\)-field \(\sigma(\mathbf{A})\) that contains \(\mathbf{A}\) (\(\sigma(\mathbf{A})\) is the intersection of all \(\sigma\)-fields that contain \(\mathbf{A}\) as a subset). \(\mathbf{A}\) also induces a unique complete field, viz. the smallest complete field \(\gamma(\mathbf{A})\) that contains \(\mathbf{A}\) (\(\gamma(\mathbf{A})\) is the intersection of all complete fields that contain \(\mathbf{A}\) as a subset). In the present case where \(\mathbf{A}\) is generated by \(Mod_{\mathbf{L}}\), \(\gamma(\mathbf{A})\) is the powerset of \(Mod_{\mathbf{L}}\), \(\wp(Mod_{\mathbf{L}})\).

\(\sigma(\mathbf{A})\), and hence \(\gamma(\mathbf{A})\), will often contain propositions that are not expressed by a sentence of \(\mathbf{L}\). For instance, let \(\alpha_{i}\) be the sentence “You should donate at least \(i\) dollars to the Society for Exact Philosophy (SEP)”, for each natural number \(i\). Assume our language \(\mathbf{L}\) contains each \(\alpha_{i}\) and whatever else it needs to contain to be a language (e.g. the negation of each \(\alpha_{i}\), \(\neg \alpha_{i}\), as well as the conjunction of any two \(\alpha_{i}\) and \(\alpha_{j}\), \(\alpha_{i}\wedge \alpha_{j}). \mathbf{L}\) generates the following finitary field \(\mathbf{A}\) of propositions: \(\mathbf{A} = \{Mod(\alpha) \subseteq Mod_{\mathbf{L}}: \alpha \in \mathbf{L}\}\), where \(Mod(\alpha)\) is the set of models in which \(\alpha\) is true. \(\mathbf{A}\) in turn induces \(\sigma(\mathbf{A})\). \(\sigma(\mathbf{A})\) contains the proposition that there is no upper bound on the number of dollars you should donate to the SEP, \(Mod(\alpha_{1})\cap \ldots \cap Mod(\alpha_{n}) \cap \ldots\), while there is no sentence in \(\mathbf{L}\) that expresses this proposition.

Hence, if we start with a language \(\mathbf{L}\), we automatically get a field \(\mathbf{A}\) induced by \(\mathbf{L}\). As we do not always get a language \(\mathbf{L}\) from a field \(\mathbf{A}\), the semantic framework of propositions is more general than the syntactic framework of sentences.

## 2. Subjective Probability Theory

Subjective probability theory is the best developed account of degrees of belief. As a consequence, there is much more material to be presented here than in the case of other accounts. This section is structured into six subsections. The topics of these subsections will also be discussed in the sections on Dempster-Shafer theory, possibility theory, ranking theory, belief revision theory, and nonmonotonic reasoning. However, as there is less (philosophical) literature about these latter accounts, there will not be separate subsections there.

### 2.1 The Formal Structure

Sophia believes to degree .55 that tomorrow it will be sunny in Vienna. Normally degrees of belief are taken to be real numbers from the interval [0,1], but we will consider an alternative below. If the ideal doxastic agent is certain that a proposition is true, her degree of belief for this proposition is 1. If the ideal doxastic agent is certain that a proposition is false, her degree of belief for this proposition is 0. However, these are extreme cases. Usually we are not certain that a proposition is true. Nor are we usually certain that a proposition is false. That does not mean, though, that we are agnostic with respect to the question whether the proposition we are concerned with is true. Our belief that it is true may well be much stronger than our belief that it is false. Degrees of belief quantify this strength of belief.

The dominant theory of degrees of belief is the theory of subjective
probabilities (for an accessible exposition see Easwaran 2011a,
2011b). On this view, degrees of belief simply follow the laws of
probability. Here is the standard definition due to Kolmogorov (1956).
Let \(\mathbf{A}\) be a field of propositions over a set \(W\) of
possibilities. A function Pr: \(\mathbf{A} \rightarrow \Re\) from
\(\mathbf{A}\) into the set of real numbers, \(\Re\), is a (finitely
additive and non-conditional) *probability measure* on
\(\mathbf{A}\) if and only if for all propositions \(A, B\) in
\(\mathbf{A}\):

The triple \(\langle W, \mathbf{A}, \Pr\rangle\) is a (finitely
additive) *probability space*. Suppose \(\mathbf{A}\) is also
closed under countable intersections (and thus a \(\sigma\)-field).
Suppose Pr additionally satisfies, for all propositions \(A_{1},
\ldots A_{n}, \ldots\) in \(\mathbf{A}\),

Then Pr is a \(\sigma\)- or *countably additive* probability
measure on \(\mathbf{A}\) (Kolmogorov 1956, ch. 2, actually gives a
different but equivalent definition; see e.g. Huber 2007a, sct. 4.1).
In this case \(\langle W, \mathbf{A}, \Pr\rangle\) is a \(\sigma\)- or
countably additive probability space.

A probability measure Pr on \(\mathbf{A}\) is *regular* just in
case \(\Pr(A) \gt 0\) for every non-empty or consistent proposition
\(A\) in \(\mathbf{A}\). Let \(\mathbf{A}^{\Pr}\) be the set of all
propositions \(A\) in \(\mathbf{A}\) with \(\Pr(A) \gt 0\). The
*conditional* probability measure \(\Pr(\cdot\mid -):
\mathbf{A}\times \mathbf{A}^{\Pr} \rightarrow \Re\) on \(\mathbf{A}\)
(based on the non-conditional probability measure Pr on
\(\mathbf{A})\) is defined for all pairs of propositions \(A\) in
\(\mathbf{A}\) and \(B\) in \(\mathbf{A}^{Pr}\) by the ratio

(Kolmogorov 1956, ch. 1, §4). The domain of the second argument place of \(\Pr(\cdot \mid -)\) is restricted to \(\mathbf{A}^{Pr}\), since the ratio \(\Pr(A\cap B)/\Pr(B)\) is not defined if \(\Pr(B) = 0\). Note that \(\Pr(\cdot\mid B)\) is a probability measure on \(\mathbf{A}\), for every proposition \(B\) in \(\mathbf{A}^{Pr}\). Some authors take conditional probability measures \(\Pr(\cdot, \text{given } -): \mathbf{A}\times(\mathbf{A}\setminus \{\varnothing \}) \rightarrow \Re\) as primitive and define (non-conditional) probability measures in terms of them as \(\Pr(A) = \Pr(A\), given \(W)\) for all propositions \(A\) in \(\mathbf{A}\) (see Hájek 2003). Conditional probabilities are usually assumed to be Popper-Rényi measures (Popper 1955, Rényi 1955, Rényi 1970, Stalnaker 1970, Spohn 1986). Spohn (2012, 202ff) critizices Popper-Rényi measures for their lack of a complete dynamics, a feature already pointed out by Harper (1976), and for their lack of a reasonable notion of independence. Relative probabilities (Heinemann 1997, Other Internet Resources) are claimed not to suffer from these two shortcomings.

### 2.2 Interpretations

What does it mean to say that Sophia’s subjective probability
for the proposition that tomorrow it will be sunny in Vienna equals
.55? This is a difficult question. Let us first answer a different
one. How do we measure Sophia’s subjective probabilities? On one
account Sophia’s subjective probability for \(A\) is measured by
her *betting ratio* for \(A\), i.e., the highest price she is
willing to pay for a bet that returns $1 if \(A\), and $0 otherwise.
On a slightly different account Sophia’s subjective probability
for \(A\) is measured by her *fair* betting ratio for \(A\),
i.e., that number \(r = b/(a + b)\) such that she considers the
following bet to be fair: $\(a\) if \(A\), and $\(-b\) otherwise \((a,
b \ge 0\) with inequality for at least one). As we may say it: Sophia
considers it to be fair to bet you \(b\) to \(a\) that \(A\).

It need not be irrational for Sophia to be willing to bet you $5.5 to $4.5 that tomorrow it will be sunny in Vienna, but not be willing to bet you $550,000 to $450,000 that this proposition is true. This reveals one assumption of the measurement of probabilistic degrees of belief in terms of (fair) betting ratios: the ideal doxastic agent is assumed to be neither risk averse nor risk prone. Gamblers in the casino are risk prone: they pay more for playing roulette than the fair monetary value according to reasonable subjective probabilities (this may be perfectly rational if the additional cost is what the gambler is willing to spend on the thrill she gets out of playing roulette). Sophia, on the other hand, is risk averse when she refuses to bet you $100,000 to $900,000 that it will be sunny in Vienna tomorrow, while she is happy to bet you $5 to $5 that this proposition is true. This may be perfectly rational as well: as a moderately wealthy philosopher, she might lose her standard of living along with this bet. Note that it does not help to say that Sophia’s fair betting ratio for \(A\) is that number \(r = b/(a + b)\) such that she considers the following bet to be fair: $\(1 - r = a/(a + b)\) if \(A\), and $\(-r = -b/(a + b)\) otherwise \((a, b \ge 0\) with inequality for at least one). Just as stakes of $1,000,000 may be too high for the measurement to work, stakes of $1 may be too low.

Another assumption is that the agent’s (fair) betting ratio for a proposition is independent of the truth value of this proposition. Obviously we cannot measure Sophia’s subjective probability for the proposition that she will be a billionaire by the end of the week by offering her a bet that returns $1 if she will, and $0 otherwise. Sophia’s subjective probability for being a billionaire by the end of the week will be fairly low. However, assuming her to be rational and that being abillionaire is something she desires, her betting ratio for this proposition will be fairly high.

Ramsey (1926) avoids the first assumption by using utilities instead of money. He avoids the second assumption by presupposing the existence of an “ethically neutral” proposition (a proposition whose truth or falsity does not affect the agent’s utilities) which the agent takes to be just as likely to be true as she takes it to be false. See Section 3.5 of the entry on interpretations of probability.

Let us return to our question of what it means for Sophia to assign a certain subjective probability to a given proposition. It is one thing for Sophia to be willing to bet at particular odds or to consider particular odds as fair. It is another thing for Sophia to have a subjective probability of .55 that tomorrow it will be sunny in Vienna. Sophia’s subjective probabilities are measured by, but not identical to her (fair) betting ratios. The latter are operationally defined and observable. The former are unobservable, theoretical entities that, following Eriksson & Hájek (2007), we should take as primitive.

### 2.3 Justifications

The theory of subjective probabilities is not an adequate description
of people’s doxastic states (Kahneman & Slovic & Tversky
1982). It is a *normative* theory that tells us how an ideal
doxastic agent’s degrees of belief *should* behave. The
thesis that an ideal doxastic agent’s degrees of belief should
obey the probability calculus is known as *probabilism*. So,
why should such an agent’s degrees of belief obey the
probability calculus?

The *Dutch Book Argument* provides an answer to this question.
(Cox’s theorem, Cox 1946, and the representation theorem of
measurement theory, Krantz & Luce & Suppes & Tversky 1971,
provide two further answers. For criticism of the latter see Meacham
& Weisberg 2011.) On its standard, pragmatic reading, the Dutch
Book Argument starts with a link between degrees of belief and betting
ratios. The second premise says that it is (pragmatically) defective
to accept a series of bets which guarantees a loss. Such a series of
bets is called a *Dutch Book* (hence the name ‘Dutch Book
Argument’). The third ingredient is the Dutch Book Theorem. The
standard, pragmatic version says that an agent’s betting ratios
obey the probability calculus if and only if an agent who has these
betting ratios cannot be Dutch Booked (i.e., presented a series of
bets each of which is acceptable according to these betting ratios,
but their combination guarantees a loss). From this it is inferred
that it is (doxastically) defective to have degrees of belief that do
not obey the probability calculus. This argument would be valid only
if the link between degrees of belief and betting ratios were identity
(in which case there would be no difference between pragmatic and
doxastic defectiveness) — and we have already seen that it is
not.

Hence there is a depragmatized Dutch Book Argument (cf. Armendt 1993, Christensen 1996, Ramsey 1926, Skyrms 1984). From a link between degrees of belief and fair betting ratios and the assumption that it is (doxastically) defective to consider a Dutch Book as fair, it is inferred that it is (doxastically) defective to have degrees of belief that violate the probability calculus. The version of the Dutch Book Theorem that licenses this inference says that an agent’s fair betting ratios obey the probability calculus if and only if the agent never considers a Dutch Book as fair. The depragmatized Dutch Book Argument is a more promising justification for probabilism. See, however, Hájek (2005; 2008).

Joyce (1998) attempts to vindicate probabilism by considering the
*accuracy* of degrees of belief. The basic idea here is that a
degree of belief function is (doxastically) defective if there exists
an alternative degree of belief function that is more accurate in each
possible world. The accuracy of a degree of belief \(b(A)\) in a
proposition \(A\) in a world \(w\) is identified with the distance
between \(b(A)\) and the truth value of \(A\) in \(w\), where 1
represents truth and 0 represents falsity. For instance, a degree of
belief up to 1 in a true proposition is more accurate, the higher it
is — and perfectly accurate if it equals 1. The overall accuracy
of a degree of belief function \(b\) in a world \(w\) is then
determined by the accuracy of the individual degrees of belief
\(b(A)\). Joyce is able to prove that, given some conditions on how to
measure distance or inaccuracy, a degree of belief function obeys the
probability calculus if and only if there exists no alternative degree
of belief function that is more accurate in each possible world (the
only-if-part is not explicitly mentioned in Joyce 1998, but needed for
the argument to work and present in Joyce 2009). Therefore, degrees of
belief should obey the probability calculus.

The objection, known as *Bronfman’s objection*, that has
attracted most attention starts by noting that Joyce’s
conditions on measures of inaccuracy do not determine a single
measure, but rather a whole set of such measures. This would
strengthen rather than weaken Joyce’s argument, were it not for
the fact that these measures differ in their recommendations as to
which alternative degree of belief function a non-probabilistic degree
of belief function should be replaced by. All of Joyce’s
measures of inaccuracy agree that an agent whose degree of belief
function violates the probability axioms should adopt a probabilistic
degree of belief function which is more accurate in each possible
world. However, these measures may differ in their recommendation as
to which particular probability measure the agent should adopt. In
fact, for each possible world, following the recommendation of one
measure will leave the agent off less accurate according to some other
measure. Why, then, should the ideal doxastic agent move from her
non-probabilistic degree of belief function to a probability measure
in the first place? Other objections are articulated in Maher (2002)
and, more recently, in Easwaran & Fitelson (2012) (see, however,
the replies by Joyce ms (Other Internet Resources) and Pettigrew
2013). Joyce (2009) responds to some of these objections. Leitgeb
& Pettigrew (2010a; 2010b) present conditions that narrow down the
set of measures of inaccuracy to the so-called quadratic scoring rules
of the form \(\lambda (b(A) - w(A))^{2}\), where \(w(A)\) is 1 if
\(A\) is true in \(w\), and 0 otherwise. This enables them to escape
Bronfman’s objection.

### 2.4 Update Rules

We have discussed how to measure and interpret subjective
probabilities, and why degrees of belief should be subjective
probabilities. It is of particular epistemological interest how to
update subjective probabilities when new information is received.
Whereas axioms 1–5 of the probability calculus are synchronic
conditions on an agent’s degree of belief function, update rules
are *diachronic* conditions that tell us how to revise our
subjective probabilities when we receive new information of a certain
format. If the new information comes in form of a certainty,
probabilism is extended by

**Strict Conditionalization**

If evidence comes only in the form of *certainties* (that is,
propositions of which you become certain), if Pr: \(\mathbf{A}
\rightarrow \Re\) is your subjective probability at time \(t\), and if
between \(t\) and \(t'\) you become certain of \(A \in \mathbf{A}\)
and no logically stronger proposition in the sense that your new
subjective probability for \(A\), but for no logically stronger
proposition, is 1 (and your subjective probabilities are not directly
affected in any other way such as forgetting etc.), then your
subjective probability at time \(t'\) should be \(\Pr(\cdot \mid A)\).

Strict conditionalization thus says that the agent’s new subjective probability for a proposition \(B\) after becoming certain of \(A\) should equal her old subjective probability for \(B\) conditional on \(A\).

Two questions arise. First, why should we update our subjective
probabilities according to strict conditionalization? Second, how
should we update our subjective probabilities when the new information
is of a different format and we do not become certain of a
proposition, but merely change our subjective probabilities for
various propositions? Jeffrey (1983a) answers the second question by
what is now known as *Jeffrey conditionalization*. The
propositions whose (non-conditional) probabilities change as a result
of the evidential experience are called *evidential
propositions*. Roughly, Jeffrey conditionalization says that the
ideal doxastic agent should keep fixed her “inferential
beliefs,” that is, the probabilities of all hypotheses
conditional on any evidential proposition.

**Jeffrey Conditionalization**

If evidence comes only in form of new degrees of belief for the
elements of a partition, if Pr: \(\mathbf{A} \rightarrow \Re\) is your
subjective probability at time \(t\), and if between \(t\) and \(t'\)
your subjective probabilities in the mutually exclusive and jointly
exhaustive propositions \(A_{i} \in \mathbf{A}\) are directly affected
and change to \(p_{i} \in [0,1]\) with \(\sum_{i} p_{i} = 1\), and the
positive part of your subjective probability is not directly affected
on any superset of the partition \(\{ A_{i}\}\) (and your subjective
probabilities are not directly affected in any other way such as
forgetting etc.), then your subjective probability at time \(t'\)
should be \(\Pr'(\cdot) = \sum_{i} \Pr(\cdot \mid A_{i}) p_{i}\).

Jeffrey conditionalization thus says that the agent’s new subjective probability for \(B\), after her subjective probabilities for the elements \(A_{i}\) of a partition have changed to \(p_{i}\), should equal the weighted sum of her old subjective probabilities for \(B\) conditional on the \(A_{i}\), where the weights are the new subjective probabilities \(p_{i}\) for the elements of the partition.

One answer to the first question is the Lewis-Teller Dutch Book
Argument (Lewis 1999, Teller 1973). Its extension to Jeffrey
conditionalization is presented in Armendt (1980) and discussed in
Skyrms (1987). For more on diachronic coherence see Skyrms (2006).
Leitgeb & Pettigrew (2010b) present a gradational accuracy
argument for strict conditionalization (see also Greaves & Wallace
2006) as well as an argument for an alternative to Jeffrey
conditionalization (for an overview see the excellent entry on
epistemic utility arguments for probabilism).
Other philosophers have provided arguments against strict (and
Jeffrey) conditionalization: van Fraassen (1989) holds that
rationality does not require the adoption of a particular update rule
(but see Hájek 1998 and Kvanvig 1994). Arntzenius (2003) uses,
among others, the “shifting” nature of self-locating
beliefs to argue against strict conditionalization as well as against
van Fraassen’s *reflection* principle (van Fraassen 1995;
for an illuminating discussion of the reflection principle and Dutch
Book arguments see Briggs 2009a). The second feature used by
Arntzenius (2003), called “spreading”, is not special to
self-locating beliefs. Weisberg (2009) argues that Jeffrey
conditionalization cannot handle a phenomenon he terms *perceptual
undermining*.

### 2.5 Ignorance

In subjective probability theory complete ignorance of the ideal
doxastic agent with respect to a particular proposition \(A\) is
modeled by the agent’s having a subjective probability of .5 for
\(A\) as well as its complement \(W \setminus A\). More generally, an
agent with subjective probability Pr is said to be *ignorant*
with respect to the partition \(\{A_{1},\ldots,A_{n}\}\) if and only
if \(\Pr(A_{i}) = 1/n\). The principle that requires an ideal doxastic
agent to equally distribute her subjective probabilities in this
fashion whenever, roughly, the agent lacks evidence of the relevant
sort is known as the *principle of indifference*. (Leitgeb
& Pettigrew 2010b also present a condition that allows them to
give a gradational accuracy argument for the principle of
indifference.) It leads to contradictory results if the partition in
question is not held fixed (see, for instance, the discussion of
*Bertrand’s paradox* in Kneale 1949). A more cautious
version of this principle that is also applicable if the partition
contains countably infinitely many elements is the *principle of
maximum entropy*. It requires the agent to adopt one of those
probability measures Pr as her degree of belief function over (the
\(\sigma\)-field generated by) the countable partition \(\{A_{i}\}\)
that maximize the quantity \(-\sum_{i} \Pr(A_{i}) \log \Pr(A_{i})\).
The latter is known as the *entropy* of Pr with respect to the
partition \(\{A_{i}\}\). See Paris (1994).

Suppose Sophia has hardly any enological knowledge. Her subjective
probability for the proposition that a Schilcher, an Austrian wine
specialty, is a white wine might reasonably be .5, as might be her
subjective probability that a Schilcher is a red wine. Contrast this
with the following case. Sophia knows for sure that a particular coin
is fair. That is, Sophia knows for sure that the objective chance of
the coin landing heads as well as its objective chance of landing
tails each equal .5. Her subjective probability for the proposition
that the coin will land heads on the next toss might reasonably be .5.
Although Sophia’s subjective probabilities are alike in these
two scenarios, there is an important epistemological difference. In
the first case a subjective probability of .5 represents complete
ignorance. In the second case it represents substantial knowledge
about the objective chances. (The principle that, roughly, one’s
prior subjective probabilities conditional on the objective chances
should equal the objective chances is called the *principal
principle* by Lewis 1980. For a recent discussion see Briggs
2009b.)

Examples like these suggest that subjective probability theory does not provide an adequate normative account of doxastic states, because it does not allow one to distinguish between ignorance and knowledge about chances. Interval-valued probabilities (Kyburg & Teng 2001, Levi 1980, van Fraassen 1990, Walley 1991) can be seen as a reply to this objection without giving up the probabilistic framework. If the ideal doxastic agent is certain of the objective chances she continues to assign sharp probabilities as usual. However, if the agent is ignorant with respect to a proposition \(A\) she will not assign it a subjective probability of .5 (or any other sharp value, for that matter). Rather, she will assign \(A\) an entire interval [\(a, b] \subseteq\) [0,1] such that she considers any number in [\(a, b\)] to be a legitimate subjective probability for \(A\). The size \(b - a\) of the interval [\(a, b\)] reflects her ignorance with respect to \(A\), that is, with respect to the partition \(\{A, W \setminus A\}\). (As suggested by the last remark, if [\(a, b\)] is the interval-probability for \(A\), then [\(1 - b, 1 - a\)] is the interval-probability for \(W \setminus A\).) If Sophia were the enological ignoramus that we have previously imagined her to be, she would assign the interval [0,1] to the proposition that a Schilcher is a white wine. If she is certain that the coin she is about to toss has an objective chance of .5 of landing heads and she subscribes to the principal principle, [.5,.5] will be the interval she assigns to the proposition that the coin will land heads on the next toss.

Interval-valued probabilities are represented as convex sets of
probability measures (a set of probability measures is *convex*
just in case the mixture \(x\Pr_{1}(\cdot) + (1 - x)\Pr_{2}(\cdot)\)
of any two probability measures \(\Pr_{1}, \Pr_{2}\) in the set is
also in the set, where \(x\) is a real number from the unit interval
[0,1]). Updating a set of probability measures is done by updating the
individual probability measures in the set. Weatherson (2007) further
generalizes this model by allowing evidence to delete some probability
measures from the original set. The idea is that one may learn not
only that various facts obtain (in which case one conditionalizes the
various probability measures on the evidence received), but also that
various evidential or inferential relationships hold, which are
represented by the conditional probabilities of the hypotheses
conditional on the data. Just as factual evidence is used to delete
worlds, “inferential” evidence is used to delete
probability measures. Among others, this allows Weatherson (2007) to
deal with one form of the so-called *problem of old evidence*
(Glymour 1980) that is related to the problem of logical omniscience
(Garber 1983, Jeffrey 1983b, Niiniluoto 1983).

### 2.6 Qualitative Belief

When epistemologists say that knowledge implies belief (see the entry
on
epistemology),
they use a qualitative notion of belief that does not admit of
degrees (except in the trivial sense that there is belief, disbelief,
and suspension of judgment). The same is true for philosophers of
language when they say that a normal speaker, on reflection, sincerely
asserts ‘\(A\)’ only if she believes that \(A\) (Kripke
1979). This raises the question whether the notion of belief can be
reduced to the notion of degree of belief. A simple thesis, known as
the *Lockean thesis*, says that one should believe a
proposition \(A\) just in case one’s degree of belief for \(A\)
is sufficiently high (‘should’ takes wide scope over
‘just in case’). Of course, the question is which
threshold is sufficiently high. We do not want to require that one
only believe those propositions whose truth one assigns subjective
probability 1 — especially if we follow Carnap (1962) and
Jeffrey (2004) and require every subjective probability to be regular
(otherwise we would not be allowed to believe anything except the
tautology). We want to take into account our fallibility, the fact
that our beliefs often turn out to be false.

Given that degrees of belief are represented as subjective
probabilities, this means that the threshold for belief should be
sufficiently large, but smaller than 1. In terms of subjective
probabilities, the Lockean thesis says that an ideal doxastic agent
with subjective probability Pr: \(\mathbf{A} \rightarrow \Re\)
believes \(A \in \mathbf{A}\) just in case \(\Pr(A) \gt 1 -
\varepsilon\) for some \(\varepsilon \in\) (0,1]. \((\varepsilon\) is
intended to be a number smaller than 1/2, but the argument to follow
holds for any positive number in the unit interval.) This, however,
leads to the *lottery paradox* (Kyburg 1961, and, much clearer,
Hempel 1962; a different paradox that does not depend on degrees of
belief is Makinson 1965’s *preface paradox*). For every
threshold \(\varepsilon \in\) (0,1] there is a finite partition
\(\{A_{1},\ldots, A_{n}\}\) of \(\mathbf{A}\) and a reasonable
subjective probability Pr: \(\mathbf{A} \rightarrow \Re\) such that
\(\Pr(A_{i}) \gt 1 - \varepsilon\) for all \(i = 1, \ldots ,n\), but
\(\Pr(A_{1}\cap \ldots \cap A_{n}) \lt 1 - \varepsilon\). For
instance, let \(\varepsilon =\) .02 and consider a lottery with 100
tickets that is known for sure to be fair and such that exactly one
ticket will win. Then it is reasonable, for every ticket \(i =
1,\ldots , 100\), to assign a subjective probability of 1/100 to the
proposition that ticket \(i\) will win. We thus believe of each single
ticket that it will lose, because \(\Pr(W \setminus A_{i}) = .99 \gt 1
- .02\). Yet we also know for sure that exactly one ticket will win.
So \(\Pr(A_{1}\cup \ldots \cup A_{n}) = 1 \gt 1 - .02\). We therefore
believe both that at least one ticket will win \((A_{1}\cup \ldots
\cup A_{n})\) as well as of each individual ticket that it will not
win \((W \setminus A_{1}, \ldots ,W \setminus A_{n})\). Together these
\(n+1\) beliefs form a belief set that is inconsistent in the sense
that its intersection is empty, \(\bigcap \{A_{1}\cup \ldots \cup
A_{n}, W \setminus A_{1}, \ldots, W \setminus A_{n}\} = \varnothing\).
Yet consistency (and deductive closure, which is implicit in taking
propositions rather than sentences as the objects of belief) have been
regarded as the minimal requirements on a belief set ever since
Hintikka (1961).

The lottery paradox has led some people to reject the notion of qualitative belief altogether (Jeffrey 1970), whereas others have been led to the idea that belief sets need not be deductively closed (Foley 1992; Foley 2009; see also Hawthorne 2004). Still others have turned the analysis on its head and elicit a context-dependent threshold parameter \(\varepsilon\) from the agent’s belief set (Hawthorne and Bovens 1999; Hawthorne 2009). Another view is to take the lottery paradox at face value and postulate two doxastic attitudes towards propositions, viz. beliefs and degrees of beliefs, that are not reducible to each other. Frankish (2004; 2009) defends a particular version of this view (in addition, he distinguishes between a mind, where one unconsciously entertains beliefs, and a supermind, where one consciously entertains beliefs). Kroedel (2012) suggests to avoid the lottery paradox by considering justification a form of permissibility: an agent’s high subjective probability for a given proposition is not sufficient for believing this proposition, but merely for the permissibility of believing this proposition. The paradox is avoided, because being permitted to believe \(A\) and being permitted to believe \(B\) does not imply that one is permitted to believe the conjunction or intersection \(A\cap B\). For further discussion on the relation between qualitative belief and probabilistic degrees of belief see Christensen (2004), Kaplan (1996), and Maher (2006). For a very different approach to combining qualitative notions from traditional epistemology with probabilistic notions see Moss (2013), who defends the thesis that properties of subjective probabilities can constitue knowledge.

Leitgeb (2013) proposes that an agent believes a proposition \(B\) if and only if there is a proposition \(C\) logically implying \(B\) such that the agent’s subjective probabilities for \(C\) conditional on any \(A\) consistent with \(C\) are above a certain threshold not smaller than 1/2. (Leitgeb 2014 relativizes this notion of belief to a question or partition. This makes it easier for an agent to have beliefs she is not certain of, but it has surprising consequences. Suppose an agent believes she has hands relative to the question of whether or not she has hands. This agent cannot lose her belief that she has hands relative to the question if she has hands or if she merely has the delusion of having hands or if she does not have hands in some other way. However, this agent can easily lose her belief that she has hands relative to the question if she has clean hands or if she has dirty hands or if she has no hands.) Leitgeb (2013)’s notion of belief satisfies the AGM axioms of belief revision presented below. However, as Lin & Kelly (2012) show, there is no “sensible” belief revision method that tracks conditionalization and satisfies these AGM axioms. This means that what an agent ends up believing according to Leitgeb (2013) and any other sensible proposal satisfying the AGM axioms if she first conditionalizes her subjective probabilities on evidence \(E\) and then extracts her beliefs will in general not coincide with what she ends up believing if she first extracts her beliefs from her subjective probabilities and then revises those beliefs by evidence \(E\). For a different critique see Staffel (2015).

Lin & Kelly (2012) consider a mutually exclusive and jointly
exhaustive set of alternative propositions. They suggest that an agent
considers such an alternative proposition to be more plausible than
another alternative proposition if and only if her subjective
probability for the former is *sufficiently* higher than her
subjective probability for the latter. According to them, the agent
believes a proposition if and only if this proposition is implied by
the disjunction of the most plausible alternative propositions. The
agent believes a proposition after revision by evidence \(E\) if and
only if this proposition is implied by the disjunction of the most
plausible alternative propositions compatible with \(E\). This method
of belief revision violates the AGM axioms, but it is sensible and
tracks conditionalization: what an agent ends up believing if she
first conditionalizes her subjective probabilities on evidence \(E\)
and then extracts her beliefs coincides with what she ends up
believing if she first extracts her beliefs from her subjective
probabilities and then revises those beliefs by evidence \(E\).

## 3. Other Accounts

### 3.1 Dempster-Shafer Theory

The theory of Dempster-Shafer (DS) belief functions (Dempster 1968,
Shafer 1976) rejects the claim that degrees of belief can be measured
by the epistemic agent’s betting behavior. A particular version
of the theory of DS belief functions is the *transferable belief
model* (Smets & Kennes 1994). It distinguishes between two
mental levels: the credal level, where one entertains and quantifies
various beliefs, and the pignistic level, where one uses those beliefs
for decision making. Its twofold thesis is that (fair) betting ratios
should indeed obey the probability calculus, but that degrees of
belief, being different from (fair) betting ratios, need not. It
suffices that they satisfy the weaker DS principles. The idea is that
whenever one is forced to bet on the pignistic level, the degrees of
belief from the credal level are used to calculate (fair) betting
ratios that satisfy the probability axioms. These in turn are then
used to calculate the agent’s expected utility for various acts
(Buchak 2014, Joyce 1999, Savage 1972). However, on the credal level
degrees of belief need not obey the probability calculus.

Whereas subjective probabilities are additive (axiom 3), DS belief
functions Bel: \(\mathbf{A} \rightarrow \Re\) are only
*super-additive*, i.e., for all propositions \(A, B\) in
\(\mathbf{A}\):

In particular, the agent’s degree of belief for \(A\) and her degree of belief for \(W \setminus A\) need not sum to 1.

What does it mean to say that Sophia’s degree of belief that tomorrow it will be sunny in Vienna equals .55, if her degrees of belief are represented by a DS belief function \(\Bel: \mathbf{A} \rightarrow \Re\)? According to one interpretation (Haenni & Lehmann 2003), the number \(\Bel(A)\) represents the strength with which \(A\) is supported by the agent’s knowledge or belief base. It may well be that this base neither supports \(A\) nor its complement \(W \setminus A\). Recall the supposition that Sophia has hardly any enological knowledge. Under this assumption her knowledge or belief base will neither support the proposition \(Red\) that a Schilcher is a red wine nor will it support the proposition \(White\) that a Schilcher is a white wine. However, due to a different aspect of her enological ignorance (namely that she does not know that there are wines, namely rosés, which are neither red nor white), Sophia may well be certain that a Schilcher is either a red wine or a white wine. Hence Sophia’s DS belief function \(\Bel\) will be such that \(\Bel(Red) = \Bel(White) = 0\) while \(\Bel(Red \cup White) = 1\). On the other hand, Sophia knows for sure that the coin she is about to toss is fair. Hence her \(\Bel\) will be such that \(\Bel(H) = \Bel(T) = .5\) as well as \(\Bel(H\cup T) = 1\). Thus we see that the theory of DS belief functions can distinguish between uncertainty and one form of ignorance. Indeed,

\[ \rI(\{A_{i}\}) = 1 - \Bel(A_{1}) - \ldots - \Bel(A_{n}) -\ldots \]
can be seen as a measure of the agent’s ignorance with respect
to the countable partition \(\{A_{i}\}\) (the \(A_{i}\) may, for
instance, be the values of a random variable such as *the price of
a bottle of Schilcher in Vienna on Aug 8, 2008*).

Figuratively, a proposition \(A\) divides the agent’s knowledge
or belief base into three mutually exclusive and jointly exhaustive
parts: a part that speaks in favor of \(A\), a part that speaks
against \(A\) (i.e., in favor of \(W \setminus A)\), and a part that
neither speaks in favor of nor against \(A\). \(\Bel(A)\) quantifies
the part that supports \(A, \Bel(W \setminus A)\) quantifies the part
that supports \(W \setminus A\), and I\((\{A, W \setminus A\}) = 1 -
\Bel(A) - \Bel(W \setminus A)\) quantifies the part that supports
neither \(A\) nor \(W \setminus A\). Formally this is spelt out in
terms of a (normalized) *mass function* on \(\mathbf{A}\), a
function m: \(\mathbf{A} \rightarrow \Re\) such that for all
propositions \(A\) in \(\mathbf{A}\):

A (normalized) mass function m: \(\mathbf{A} \rightarrow \Re\) induces
a *DS belief function* Bel: \(\mathbf{A} \rightarrow \Re\) by
defining for each \(A\) in \(\mathbf{A}\),

The relation to subjective probabilities can now be stated as follows. Subjective probabilities require the ideal doxastic agent to divide her knowledge or belief base into two mutually exclusive and jointly exhaustive parts: one that speaks in favor of \(A\), and one that speaks against \(A\). That is, the neutral part has to be distributed among the positive and negative parts. Subjective probabilities can thus be seen as DS belief functions without ignorance. (See Pryor (manuscript, Other Internet Resources) for a model of doxastic states that comprises probability theory and Dempster-Shafer theory as special cases.)

A DS belief function \(\Bel: \mathbf{A} \rightarrow \Re\) induces a
Dempster-Shafer *plausibility* function \(\rP: \mathbf{A}
\rightarrow \Re\), where for all \(A\) in \(\mathbf{A}\),

Degrees of plausibility quantify that part of the agent’s knowledge or belief base which is compatible with \(A\), i.e., the part that supports \(A\) and the part that supports neither \(A\) nor \(W \setminus A\). In terms of the (normalized) mass function m inducing Bel this means that

\[ \rP(A) = \sum_{B\cap A \ne \varnothing, B\in\mathbf{A}} \m(B). \]If, and only if, \(\Bel(A)\) and \(\Bel(W \setminus A)\) sum to less than 1, \(\rP(A)\) and \(\rP(W \setminus A)\) sum to more than 1. For an overview see Haenni (2009).

The theory of DS belief functions is more general than the theory of
subjective probability in the sense that the latter requires degrees
of belief to be additive, while the former merely requires them to be
super-additive. In another sense, though, the converse is true. The
reason is that DS belief functions can be represented as convex sets
of probabilities (Walley 1991). As not every convex set of
probabilities can be represented as a DS belief function, sets of
probabilities provide the most general framework we have come across
so far. An even more general framework is provided by Halpern’s
*plausibility measures* (Halpern 2003). These are functions Pl:
\(\mathbf{A} \rightarrow \Re\) such that for all \(A, B\) in
\(\mathbf{A}\):

and

\[\tag{7} \Pl(A) \le \Pl(B) \text{ if } A \subseteq B. \]In fact, these are only the special cases of real-valued plausibility measures. While it is fairly uncontroversial that an ideal doxastic agent’s degree of belief function should obey Halpern’s plausibility calculus, it is questionable whether his minimal principles are all there is to the rationality of degrees of belief. The resulting epistemology is, in any case, very thin. It should be noted, though, that Halpern does not intend plausibility measures to provide a complete epistemology, but rather a general framework to study more specific accounts.

### 3.2 Possibility Theory

Possibility theory (Dubois & Prade 1988) is based on fuzzy set theory (Zadeh 1978). According to the latter theory, an element need not belong to a given set either completely or not at all, but may be a member of the set to a certain degree. For instance, Sophia may belong to the set of politically active people to a degree of .88. This is represented by a membership function \(\mu_{A}: W \rightarrow [0,1]\), where \(\mu_{A}(w)\) is the degree of membership to which person \(w \in W\) belongs to the set of politically active people \(A\).

Furthermore, the degree \(\mu_{W \setminus A}\)(Sophia) to which Sophia belongs to the set \(W \setminus A\) of people who are not politically active equals \(1 - \mu_{A}\)(Sophia). Moreover, if \(\mu_{M}: W \rightarrow [0,1]\) is the membership function for the set of philosophically minded people, then the degree of membership to which Sophia belongs to the set \(A\cup M\) of politically active or philosophically minded people is given by

\[ \mu_{A\cup M\,}(\Sophia) = \max\{\mu_{A}(\Sophia),\mu_{M}(\Sophia)\}. \]Similarly, the degree of membership to which Sophia belongs to the set \(A\cap M\) of politically active and philosophically minded people is given by

\[ \mu_{A\cap M\,}(\Sophia) = \min\{\mu_{A}(\Sophia), \mu_{M}(\Sophia)\}. \]
\(m_{A\cap M}(\Sophia)\) is interpreted as the degree to which the
vague statement “Sophia is a politically active and
philosophically minded person” is true (for vagueness see
Égré & Barberousse 2014, Raffman 2014, Williamson
1994 as well as the entry on
vagueness;
Field (forthcoming) discusses uncertainty due to vagueness in a
probabilistic setting). Degrees of truth belong to the philosophy of
language. They do not (yet) have anything to do with degrees of
belief, which belong to epistemology. In particular, note that degrees
of truth are usually considered to be *truth functional* (the
truth value of a compound statement such as \(A\wedge B\) is a
function of the truth values of its constituent statements \(A, B\);
that is, the truth values of \(A\) and \(B\) determine the truth value
of \(A\wedge B)\). Degrees of belief, on the other hand, are hardly
ever considered to be truth functional. For instance, probabilities
are not truth functional, because the probability of \(A\cap B\) is
not determined by the probability of \(A\) and the probability of
\(B\). That is, there is no function \(f\) such that for all
probability spaces \(\langle W, \mathbf{A}, \Pr\rangle\) and all
propositions \(A, B\) in \(\mathbf{A}\): \(\Pr(A\cap B) =
f(\Pr(A),\Pr(B))\).

Suppose someone says that Sophia is tall. How tall is a tall person?
Is a person with a height of \(5'9''\) tall? Or does a person have to
be at least \(5'10''\) in order to be tall? Although you know that
Sophia is tall, your knowledge is incomplete due to the vagueness of
the term ‘tall’. Here possibility theory enters by
equipping you with a (normalized) *possibility distribution*, a
function \(\pi : W \rightarrow [0,1]\) with \(\pi(w) = 1\) for at
least one \(w \in W\). The motivation for the latter requirement is
that at least (in fact, exactly) one possibility is the actual
possibility, and hence at least one possibility must be maximally
possible. Such a possibility distribution \(\pi : W \rightarrow
[0,1]\) on the set of possibilities \(W\) is extended to a possibility
*measure* \(\Pi : \mathbf{A} \rightarrow \Re\) on the field
\(\mathbf{A}\) over \(W\) by defining for each \(A\) in
\(\mathbf{A}\),

This entails that possibility measures \(\Pi : \mathbf{A} \rightarrow
\Re\) are *maximitive* (and hence *sub-additive*), i.e.,
for all \(A, B \in \mathbf{A}\):

The idea is that, roughly, a proposition is at least as possible as each of the possibilities it comprises, and no more possible than the “most possible” possibility. Sometimes, though, there is no most possible possibility (i.e., the supremum is no maximum). For instance, this is the case when the degrees of possibility are \( \bfrac{1}{2}, \bfrac{3}{4}, \bfrac{7}{8}, \ldots, \bfrac{2^n-1}{2^n},\ldots\) In this case the degree of possibility for the proposition is the smallest number which is at least as great as all the degrees of possibilities of its elements. In our example this is 1. (As will be seen below, this is the main formal difference between possibility measures and non-conditional ranking functions.)

We can define possibility measures without recourse to an underlying possibility distribution as functions \(\Pi : \mathbf{A} \rightarrow \Re\) such that for all \(A, B \in \mathbf{A}\):

\[\begin{align} \Pi(\varnothing) &= 0, \\ \Pi(W) &= 1, \text{ and } \\ \Pi(A\cup B) &= \max\{\Pi(A), \Pi(B)\}. \end{align}\]
It is important to note, though, that the last clause is not
well-defined for disjunctions or unions of infinitely many
propositions (in this case one would have to use the supremum
operation sup instead of the maximum operation max). The dual notion
of a *necessity measure* \(\Nu : \mathbf{A} \rightarrow \Re\)
is defined for all \(A\) in \(\mathbf{A}\) by

This implies that

\[ \Nu(A\cap B) = \min\{\Nu(A), \Nu(B)\}. \]The latter equation can be used to start with necessity measures as primitive. Define them as functions \(\Nu : \mathbf{A} \rightarrow \Re\) such that for all \(A, B \in \mathbf{A}\):

\[\begin{align} \Nu(\varnothing) &= 0, \\ \Nu(W) &= 1, \\ \Nu(A\cap B) &= \min\{\Nu(A), \Nu(B)\}. \end{align}\]Then possibility measures \(\Pi : \mathbf{A} \rightarrow \Re\) are obtained by the equation:

\[ \Pi(A) = 1 - \Nu(W \setminus A). \]Although the agent’s doxastic state in possibility theory is completely specified by either \(\Pi\) or \(\Nu\), the agent’s epistemic attitude towards a particular proposition \(A\) is only jointly specified by \(\Pi(A)\) and \(\Nu(A)\). The reason is that, in contrast to probability theory, \(\Pi(W \setminus A)\) is not determined by \(\Pi(A)\). Thus, degrees of possibility (as well as degrees of necessity) are not truth functional either. The same is true for DS belief and plausibility functions.

In our example, let \(W_{H}\) be the set of values of the random
variable \(H =\) *Sophia’s height in inches between \(0''\)
and \(199''\)*, \(W_{H} = \{0, \ldots ,199\}.\) \(\pi_{H}: W_{H}
\rightarrow [0,1]\) is your possibility distribution. It is supposed
to represent your doxastic state concerning Sophia’s height,
which contains the knowledge that she is tall. For instance, your
\(\pi_{H}\) might be such that \(\pi_{H}(n) = 1\) for any natural
number \(n \in [60,72] \subseteq W\). In this case your degree of
possibility for the proposition that Sophia is at least \(5'10''\) is
\(\Pi_{H}(H \ge 70) = \sup\{\pi_{H}(n): n \ge 70\} = 1\).

The connection to fuzzy set theory is that your possibility distribution \(\pi_{H}: W_{H} \rightarrow [0,1]\), which is based on the knowledge that Sophia is tall, can be interpreted as the membership function \(\mu_{T}: W_{H} \rightarrow [0,1]\) of the set of tall people. So the epistemological thesis of possibility theory is that your degree of possibility for the proposition that Sophia is \(5'10''\) given the vague and hence incomplete knowledge that Sophia is tall should equal the degree of membership to which a \(5'10''\) tall person belongs to the set of tall people. In more suggestive notation,

\[ \pi_{H}(H = n \mid T) = \mu_{T}(n). \]Let us summarize the accounts we have dealt with so far. Subjective probability theory requires degrees of belief to be additive. An ideal doxastic agent’s subjective probability Pr: \(\mathbf{A} \rightarrow \Re\) is such that for any \(A, B\) in \(\mathbf{A}\) with \(A\cap B = \varnothing\):

\[ \Pr(A) + \Pr(B) = \Pr(A\cup B) \]The theory of DS belief functions requires degrees of belief to be super-additive. An ideal doxastic agent’s DS belief function Bel: \(\mathbf{A} \rightarrow \Re\) is such that for any \(A, B\) in \(\mathbf{A}\) with \(A\cap B = \varnothing\):

\[ \Bel(A) + \Bel(B) \le \Bel(A\cup B) \]Possibility theory requires degrees of belief to be maxitive and hence sub-additive. An ideal doxastic agent’s possibility measure \(\Pi : \mathbf{A} \rightarrow \Re\) is such that for any \(A, B\) in \(\mathbf{A}\):

\[ \Pi(A) + \Pi(B) \ge \max\{\Pi(A), \Pi(B)\} = \Pi(A \cup B) \]All of these functions are special cases of real-valued plausibility measures Pl: \(\mathbf{A} \rightarrow \Re\), which are such that for all \(A, B\) in \(\mathbf{A}\):

\[ \Pl(A) \le \Pl(B) \text{ if } A \subseteq B. \]We have seen that each of these accounts provides an adequate model for some doxastic situation (plausibility measures do so trivially). We have further noticed that subjective probabilities do not immediately give rise to a notion of qualitative belief that is consistent and deductively closed (unless qualitative belief is identified with a subjective probability of 1). Therefore the same is true for the more general DS belief functions and plausibility measures. Besides the accounts of Leitgeb (2013; 2014) and Lin & Kelly (2012) discussed above it should be noted that Roorda (1995, Other Internet Resources) provides a definition of belief in terms of sets of probabilities. (As will be mentioned in the next section, there is a notion of belief in possibility theory that is consistent and deductively closed in a finite sense.)

Moreover, we have seen arguments for the thesis that degrees of belief should obey the probability axioms. Smets (2002) tries to justify the corresponding thesis for DS belief functions. To the best of my knowledge nobody has yet published an argument for the thesis that degrees of belief should be plausibility or possibility measures, respectively (in the sense that all and only plausibility respectively possibility measures are rational degree of belief functions). However, there exists such an argument for ranking functions, which are formally similar to possibility measures. Ranking functions also give rise to a notion of belief that is consistent and deductively closed (indeed, this very feature is the starting point for the argument that doxastic states should obey the ranking calculus). They are the topic of the next section.

### 3.3 Ranking Theory

Subjective probability theory as well as the theory of DS belief functions take the objects of belief to be propositions. Possibility theory does so only indirectly, although possibility measures on a field of propositions \(\mathbf{A}\) can also be defined without recourse to a possibility distribution on the underlying set \(W\) of possibilities.

A possibility \(w\) in \(W\) is a complete and consistent description of the world relative to the expressive power of \(W\). \(W\) may contain just two possibilities: according to \(w_{1}\) tomorrow it will be sunny in Vienna, according to \(w_{2}\) it will not. On the other end of the spectrum, \(W\) may comprise all metaphysically possible, or even all logically possible worlds (for more see the entry on possible worlds.)

Usually we are not certain which of the possibilities in \(W\) corresponds to the actual world. Otherwise these possibilities would not be genuine possibilities for us, and our degree of belief function would collapse into a truth value assignment. However, to say that we are not certain which possibility it is that corresponds to the actual world does not mean that all possibilities are on a par. Some of them will be really far-fetched, while others will seem to be more reasonable candidates for the actual possibility.

This gives rise to the following consideration. We can
*partition* the set of possibilities, that is, form sets of
possibilities that are mutually exclusive and jointly exhaustive. Then
we can *order* the cells of this partition according to their
plausibility. The first cell in this ordering contains the
possibilities that we take to be the most reasonable candidates for
the actual possibility. The second cell contains the possibilities
which we take to be the second most reasonable candidates. And so
on.

If you are still equipped with your possibility distribution from the preceding section you can use your degrees of possibility for the various possibilities to obtain such an ordered partition. Note, though, that an ordered partition — in contrast to your possibility distribution — contains no more than ordinal information. While your possibility distribution enables you to say how possible you take a particular possibility to be, an ordered partition only allows you to say that one possibility \(w_{1}\) is more plausible than another possibility \(w_{2}\). In fact, an ordered partition does not even enable you to express that the difference between your plausibility for \(w_{1}\) (say, tomorrow the temperature in Vienna will be between 70°F and 75°F) and for \(w_{2}\) (say, tomorrow the temperature in Vienna will be between 75°F and 80°F) is smaller than the difference between your plausibility for \(w_{2}\) and for the far-fetched \(w_{3}\) (say, tomorrow the temperature in Vienna will be between 120°F and 125°F).

This takes us directly to ranking theory (Spohn 1988 and 1990 and,
especially, 2012), which goes one step further. Rather than merely
ordering the possibilities in \(W\), a *pointwise ranking
function* \(\kappa : W \rightarrow \bN\cup \{\infty \}\)
additionally assigns natural numbers from \(\bN\cup \{\infty \}\) to
the cells of possibilities. These numbers represent the grades of
disbelief you assign to the various (cells of) possibilities in \(W\).
The result is a *numbered partition* of \(W\),

The first cell \(\kappa^{-1}(0)\) contains the possibilities which are not disbelieved (which does not mean that they are believed). The second cell \(\kappa^{-1}(1)\) is the set of possibilities which are disbelieved to degree 1. And so on. It is important to note that, except for \(\kappa^{-1}(0)\), the cells \(\kappa^{-1}(n)\) may be empty, and so would not appear at all in the corresponding ordered partition. \(\kappa^{-1}(0)\) must not be empty, though. The reason is that one cannot consistently disbelieve everything.

More precisely, a function \(\kappa : W \rightarrow \bN\cup \{\infty
\}\) from a set of possibilities \(W\) into the set of natural numbers
extended by \(\infty\), \(\bN\cup \{\infty \}\), is a *pointwise
ranking function* just in case \(\kappa(w) = 0\) for at least one
\(w\) in \(W\), i.e., just in case \(\kappa^{-1}(0) \ne
\varnothing\). The latter requirement says that you should not
disbelieve every possibility. It is justified, because you know for
sure that one possibility is actual. A pointwise ranking function
\(\kappa : W \rightarrow \bN\cup \{\infty \}\) on \(W\) induces a
*ranking function* \(\varrho : \mathbf{A} \rightarrow \bN\cup
\{\infty \}\) on a field \(\mathbf{A}\) of propositions over \(W\) by
defining for each \(A\) in \(\mathbf{A}\),

This entails that ranking functions \(\varrho : \mathbf{A} \rightarrow
\bN\cup \{\infty \}\) are (finitely) *minimitive* (and hence
super-additive), i.e., for all \(A, B\) in \(\mathbf{A}\),

As in the case of possibility theory, (finitely minimitive and non-conditional) ranking functions can be directly defined on a field \(\mathbf{A}\) of propositions over a set of possibilities \(W\) as functions \(\varrho : \mathbf{A} \rightarrow \bN\cup \{\infty \}\) such that for all \(A, B\) in \(\mathbf{A}\):

\[\begin{align} \varrho(\varnothing) &= \infty, \\ \varrho(W) &= 0, \text{ and } \\ \varrho(A\cup B) &= \min \{\varrho(A), \varrho(B)\}. \end{align}\]
The triple \(\langle W, \mathbf{A}, \varrho \rangle\) is a
(*finitely minimitive*) *ranking space*. Suppose
\(\mathbf{A}\) is closed under countable/complete intersections (and
thus a \(\sigma\)-/\(\gamma\)-field). Suppose further that \(\varrho\)
additionally satisfies, for all countable/arbitrary \(\bB \subseteq
\mathbf{A}\),

Then \(\varrho\) is a *countably*/*completely
minimitive* ranking function, and \(\langle W, \mathbf{A}, \varrho
\rangle\) is a \(\sigma\)- or countably/\(\gamma\)- or completely
minimitive ranking space. Finally, a ranking function \(\varrho\) on
\(\mathbf{A}\) is *regular* just in case \(\varrho(A) \lt
\infty\) for every non-empty or consistent proposition \(A\) in
\(\mathbf{A}\). For more see Huber (2006), which discusses under which
conditions ranking functions on fields of propositions induce
pointwise ranking functions on the underlying set of
possibilities.

Let us pause for a moment. The previous paragraphs introduce a lot of terminology for something that seems to add only little to what we have already discussed. Let the necessity measures of possibility theory assign natural instead of real numbers in the unit interval to the various propositions so that \(\infty\) instead of 1 represents maximal necessity/possibility. The axioms for necessity measures then become

\[\begin{align} \Nu(\varnothing) &= 0, \\ \Nu(W) &= \infty \text{ (instead of 1),} \\ \Nu(A\cap B) &= \min \{\Nu(A), \Nu(B)\}. \end{align}\]Now think of the rank of a proposition \(A\) as the degree of necessity of its negation \(W \setminus A, \varrho(A) = \Nu(W \setminus A)\). Seen this way, finitely minimitive ranking functions are a mere terminological variant of necessity measures, for

\[\begin{align} \varrho(\varnothing) &= \Nu(W) = \infty \\ \varrho(W) &= \Nu(\varnothing) = 0 \\ \varrho(A\cup B) &= \Nu((W \setminus A)\cap(W \setminus B)) \\ &= \min\{\Nu(W \setminus A), \Nu(W \setminus B)\} \\ &= \min\{\varrho(A), \varrho(B)\}. \end{align}\](If we take necessity measures as primitive rather than letting them be induced by possibility measures, and if we continue to follow the rank-theoretic policy of adopting a well-ordered range, we can obviously also define countably and completely minimitive necessity measures.) Of course, the fact that (finitely minimitive and non-conditional) ranking functions and necessity measures are formally alike does not mean that their interpretations are the same.

The latter is the case, though, when we compare ranking functions and
Shackle’s degrees of *potential surprise* (Shackle 1949;
1969). (These degrees of potential surprise have made their way into
philosophy mainly through the work of Isaac Levi. See Levi 1967a;
1978.) So what justifies devoting a whole section to ranking
functions?

Shackle’s theory lacks a notion of *conditional*
potential surprise. (Shackle 1969, 79ff, seems to assume a notion of
conditional potential surprise as primitive that appears in his axiom
7. This axiom further relies on a connective that behaves like
conjunction except that it is not commutative and is best interpreted
as “\(A\) followed by \(B\)”. Axiom 7, in its stronger
version from p. 83, seems to say that the degree of potential surprise
of “A followed by \(B\)” is the greater of the degree of
potential surprise of \(A\) and the degree of potential surprise of
\(B\) given \(A\), i.e., \(\varsigma(A \text{ followed by } B) =
\max\{\varsigma(A), \varsigma(B\mid A)\}\) where \(\varsigma\) is the
measure of potential surprise. Spohn 2009, sct. 4.1, discusses
Shackle’s struggle with the notion of conditional potential
surprise.)

Possibility theory, on the other hand, offers *two* notions of
conditional possibility (Dubois & Prade 1988). The first notion of
conditional possibility is obtained by the equation

It is mainly motivated by the desire to have a notion of conditional possibility that also makes sense if possibility does not admit of degrees, but is a merely comparative notion. The second notion of conditional possibility is obtained by the equation

\[ \Pi(A\cap B) = \Pi(A)\cdot \Pi(B\mid A). \]The inspiration for this notion seems to come from probability theory. While none of these two notions is the one we have in ranking theory, Spohn (2009), relying on Halpern (2003), shows that by adopting the second notion of conditional possibility one can render possibility theory isomorphic to a real-valued version of ranking theory.

For standard ranking functions with a well-ordered range conditional
ranks are defined as follows. The *conditional* ranking
function \(\varrho(\cdot\mid \cdot): \mathbf{A}\times \mathbf{A}
\rightarrow \bN\cup \{\infty \}\) on \(\mathbf{A}\) (based on the
non-conditional ranking function \(\varrho\) on \(\mathbf{A})\) is
defined for all pairs of propositions \(A, B\) in \(\mathbf{A}\) with
\(A \ne \varnothing\) by

where \(\infty - \infty = 0\). Further stipulating \(\varrho(\varnothing \mid B) = \infty\) for all \(B\) in \(\mathbf{A}\) guarantees that \(\varrho(\cdot\mid B): \mathbf{A} \rightarrow \bN\cup \{\infty \}\) is a ranking function, for every \(B\) in \(\mathbf{A}\). It would, of course, also be possible to take conditional ranking functions \(\varrho(\cdot, \text{given } \cdot): \mathbf{A}\times \mathbf{A} \rightarrow \bN\cup \{\infty \}\) as primitive and define (non-conditional) ranking functions in terms of them as \(\varrho(A) = \varrho(A, \text{given } W)\) for all propositions \(A\) in \(\mathbf{A}\).

The number \(\varrho(A)\) represents the agent’s degree of disbelief for the proposition \(A\). If \(\varrho(A) \gt 0\), the agent disbelieves \(A\) to a positive degree. Therefore, on pain of inconsistency, she cannot also disbelieve \(W \setminus A\) to a positive degree. In other words, for every proposition \(A\) in \(\mathbf{A}\), at least one of \(A, W \setminus A\) has to be assigned rank 0. If \(\varrho(A) = 0\), the agent does not disbelieve \(A\) to a positive degree. However, this does not mean that she believes \(A\) to a positive degree \(-\) the agent may suspend judgment and assign rank 0 to both \(A\) and \(W \setminus A\). So belief in a proposition is characterized by disbelief in its negation.

For each ranking function \(\varrho : \mathbf{A} \rightarrow \bN\cup
\{\infty \}\) we can define a corresponding *belief function*
\(\beta : \mathbf{A} \rightarrow Z\cup \{\infty \}\cup \{-\infty \}\)
that assigns positive numbers to those propositions that are believed,
negative numbers to those propositions that are disbelieved, and 0 to
those propositions with respect to which the agent suspends
judgment:

Each ranking function \(\varrho : \mathbf{A} \rightarrow \bN\cup
\{\infty \}\) induces a *belief set*

\(\bB\) is the set of all propositions the agent believes to some positive degree, or equivalently, whose complements she disbelieves to a positive degree. The belief set \(\bB\) induced by a ranking function \(\varrho\) is consistent and deductively closed (in the finite sense). The same is true for the belief set induced by a possibility measure \(\Pi : \mathbf{A} \rightarrow \Re\),

\[\begin{align} \bB_{\Pi} &= \{A \in \mathbf{A}: \Pi(W \setminus A) \lt 1\} \\ &= \{A \in \mathbf{A}: \Nu(A) \gt 0\}. \end{align}\]If \(\varrho\) is a countably/completely minimitive ranking function, the belief set \(\bB\) induced by \(\varrho\) is consistent and deductively closed in the following countable/complete sense: \(\cap \mathbf{C} \ne \varnothing\) for every countable/arbitrary \(\mathbf{C} \subseteq \bB\); and \(A \in \bB\) whenever \(\cap \mathbf{C} \subseteq A\) for some countable/arbitrary \(\mathbf{C} \subseteq \bB\) and any \(A \in \mathbf{A}\). Ranking theory thus offers a link between belief and degrees of belief that is preserved when we move from the finite to the countably or uncountably infinite case. As shown by the example in Section 3.2, this is not the case for possibility theory. (Of course, as indicated above, the possibility theorist can copy ranking theory by taking necessity measures as primitive and by adopting a well-ordered range).

Much as for subjective probabilities, there are rules for updating one’s doxastic state represented by a ranking function. In case the new information comes in form of a certainty, ranking theory’s counterpart to probability theory’s strict conditionalization is

**Plain Conditionalization**.

If evidence comes only in form of certainties, if \(\varrho :
\mathbf{A} \rightarrow \bN\cup \{\infty \}\) is your ranking function
at time \(t\), and if between \(t\) and \(t'\) you become certain of
\(A \in \mathbf{A}\) and no logically stronger proposition in the
sense that your new rank for \(W \setminus A\), but no logically
weaker proposition, is \(\infty\) (and your ranks are not directly
affected in any other way such as forgetting etc.), then your ranking
function at time \(t'\) should be \(\varrho(\cdot\mid A)\).

If the new information merely changes your ranks for various propositions, ranking theory’s counterpart to probability theory’s Jeffrey conditionalization is

**Spohn Conditionalization**.

If evidence comes only in form of new grades of disbelief for the
elements of a partition, if \(\varrho : \mathbf{A} \rightarrow \bN\cup
\{\infty \}\) is your ranking function at time \(t\), and between
\(t\) and \(t'\) your ranks in the mutually exclusive and jointly
exhaustive propositions \(A_{i} \in \mathbf{A}\) are directly affected
and change to \(n_{i} \in \bN\cup \{\infty \}\) with \(\min_{i} n_{i}
= 0\), and the finite part of your ranking function does not change on
any superset of the partition \(\{A_{i}\}\) (and your ranks are not
directly affected in any other way such as forgetting etc.), then your
ranking function at time \(t'\) should be \(\varrho '(\cdot) =
\min_{i}\{\varrho(\cdot\mid A_{i}) + n_{i}\}\).

As the reader will have noticed by now, whenever we substitute 0 for 1, \(\infty\) for 0, \(\min\) for \(\sum\), \(\sum\) for \(\prod\), and \(\gt\) for \(\lt\), a true statement about probabilities almost always turns into a true statement about ranking functions. (There are but a few known exceptions to this transformation. Spohn 1994 mentions one.) For a comparison of probability theory and ranking theory see Spohn (2009, sct. 3).

Three complaints about Jeffrey conditionalization carry over to Spohn conditionalization. First, Jeffrey conditionalization is not commutative (Levi 1976b). The same is true of Spohn conditionalization. Second, any two regular probability measures can be related to each other via Jeffrey conditionalization (by letting the evidential partition consist of the set of singletons \(\{w\}\) containing the possibilities \(w\) in \(W)\). The same is true of any two regular ranking functions and Spohn conditionalization. Therefore, so the complaint goes, these rules are empty as normative constraints. Third, Weisberg (2015) argues that Spohn conditionalization cannot handle perceptual undermining either.

The first complaint misfires, because both Jeffrey and Spohn
conditionalization are *result*- rather
*evidence*-*oriented*: the parameters \(p_{i}\) and
\(n_{i}\) characterize the resulting degree of (dis)belief in
\(E_{i}\) rather than the amount by which the evidence received
between \(t\) and \(t'\) boosts or lowers the degree of (dis)belief in
\(E_{i}\). Therefore these parameters depend on both the prior
doxastic states Pr and \(\varrho\), respectively, and the evidence
received between \(t\) and \(t'\). Evidence first shifting \(E\) from
\(p\) to \(p'\) and then to \(p''\) is not a rearrangement of evidence
first shifting \(E\) from \(p\) to \(p''\) and then to \(p'\). Field
(1978) presents a probabilistic update rule that is evidence-oriented
in the sense of characterizing the evidence as such, independently of
the prior doxastic state. Shenoy (1991) presents a rank-theoretic
update rule that is evidence-oriented in this sense. These two update
rules are commutative.

The second complaint misfires, because it confuses input and output: Jeffrey conditionalization does not rule out any evidential input of the appropriate format, just as it does not rule out any prior epistemic state not already ruled out by the probability calculus. The same is true of Spohn conditionalization and the ranking calculus. That does not mean that these rules are empty as normative constraints, though. On the contrary, for each admissible prior doxastic state and each admissible evidential input there is only one posterior doxastic state not ruled by Jeffrey (Spohn) conditionalization. Huber (2014) defends Jeffrey and Spohn conditionalization against Weisberg’s charge.

One reason why an ideal doxastic agent’s degrees of belief should obey the probability calculus is that otherwise she is vulnerable to a Dutch Book (standard version) or an inconsistent evaluation of the fairness of bets (depragmatized version). For similar reasons she should update her subjective probability according to strict or Jeffrey conditionalization, depending on the format of the new information. Why should grades of disbelief obey the ranking calculus? And why should an ideal doxastic agent update her ranking function according to plain or Spohn Conditionalization?

The answers to these questions require a bit of terminology. An ideal
doxastic agent’s degree of *entrenchment* for a
proposition \(A\) is the number of “independent and minimally
positively reliable” information sources saying \(A\) that it
takes for the agent to give up her disbelief that \(A\). If the agent
does not disbelieve \(A\) to begin with, her degree of entrenchment
for \(A\) is 0. If no finite number of information sources is able to
make the agent give up her disbelief that \(A\), her degree of
entrenchment for \(A\) is \(\infty\). Suppose we want to determine
Sophia’s degree of entrenchment for the proposition that Vienna
is the capital of Austria. This can be done by putting her on, say,
the Stephansplatz, a popular place in the old town of Vienna, and by
counting the number of people passing by and telling her that Vienna
is the capital of Austria. Her degree of entrenchment for the
proposition that Vienna is the capital of Austria equals \(n\)
precisely if she stops disbelieving that Vienna is the capital of
Austria after \(n\) people have passed by and told her it is. The
relation between these operationally defined degrees of entrenchment
and the theoretical grades of disbelief is similar to the relation
between betting ratios and degrees of belief: under suitable
conditions (when the information sources are independent and minimally
positively reliable) the former can be used to measure the latter.
Most of the time the conditions are not suitable, though. In section
2.2 primitivism seemed to be the only plausible game in town. In the
present case “going hypothetical” (Eriksson &
Hájek 2007) is more promising: the agent’s *grade of
disbelief* in \(A\) is the number of information sources saying
\(A\) that it would take for her to give up her qualitative disbelief
that \(A\), if those sources were independent and minimally positively
reliable.

Now we are in the position to say why degrees of disbelief should obey the ranking calculus. They should do so, because an agent’s belief set is and will always be consistent and deductively closed in the finite/countable/complete sense just in case her entrenchment function is a finitely/countably/completely minimitive ranking function and, depending on the format of the evidence, the agent updates according to plain or Spohn conditionalization (Huber 2007b). This theorem can be used to establish the thesis that an ideal doxastic agent’s beliefs should obey the synchronic and diachronic rules of the ranking calculus. It can be used to provide a means-ends justification for this thesis in the spirit of epistemic consequentialism (Percival 2002, Stalnaker 2002). The idea is that obeying the normative constraints of the ranking calculus is a (necessary and sufficient) means to attaining the end of being “eternally consistent and deductively closed.” The latter end in turn is a (necessary, but insufficient) means to attaining the end of always having only true beliefs, and as many thereof as possible. Brössel, Eder & Huber (2013) discuss the importance of this result as well as its Bayesian role-model, Joyce’s (1998; 2009) “non-pragmatic vindication of probabilism” discussed above, for means-ends epistemology in general.

It follows that the above notion of conditional ranks is the only good
notion for standard ranking functions with a well-ordered domain:
plain and Spohn conditionalization depend on the notion of conditional
ranks, and the theorem does not hold if we replace this notion by
another one. Furthermore, one reason for adopting standard ranking
functions with a well-ordered domain is that the notion of degree of
entrenchement makes sense only for natural (or ordinal) numbers,
because one has to *count* the independent and minimally
positively reliable information sources. The seemingly small
differences between possibility theory and ranking theory thus turn
out to be crucial.

With the possible exception of decision making (see, however, Giang & Shenoy 2000), it seems that we can do everything with ranking functions that we can do with probability measures. Ranking theory also has a notion of qualitative belief that is vital if we want to stay in tune with traditional epistemology. This allows for rank-theoretic theories of belief revision and of nonmonotonic reasoning, which are the topic of the final two sections.

### 3.4 Belief Revision Theory

We have moved from degrees of belief to belief, and found ranking theory to provide a link between these two notions. While some philosophers (most probabilists, e.g. Jeffrey 1970) hold the view that degrees of belief are more basic than beliefs, others adopt the opposite view. This opposite view is generally adopted in traditional epistemology, which is mainly concerned with the notion of knowledge and its tripartite definition as justified true belief. Belief in this sense comes in three “degrees”: the ideal doxastic agent either believes \(A\), or else she believes \(W \setminus A\) and thus disbelieves \(A\), or else she believes neither \(A\) nor \(W \setminus A\) and thus suspends judgment with respect to \(A\). Ordinary doxastic agents sometimes believe both \(A\) and \(W \setminus A\), but we assume that they should not do so, and hence ignore this case.

According to this view, an agent’s doxastic state is characterized by the set of propositions she believes, her belief set. Such a belief set is required to be consistent and deductively closed (Hintikka 1961 and the entry on see the entry on epistemic logic). Here a belief set is usually represented as a set of sentences from a language \(\mathbf{L}\) rather than as a set of propositions. The question addressed by belief revision theory (Alchourrón & Gärdenfors & Makinson 1985, Gärdenfors 1988, Gärdenfors & Rott 1995) is how an ideal doxastic agent should revise her belief set \(\bB \subseteq \mathbf{L}\) if she learns new information in the form of a sentence \(\alpha \in \mathbf{L}\). If \(\alpha\) is consistent with \(\bB\) in the sense that \(\neg \alpha\) is not derivable from \(\bB\), the agent should simply add \(\alpha\) to \(\bB\) and close this set under (classical) logical consequence. In this case her new belief set, i.e., her old belief set \(\bB\) revised by the new information \(\alpha\), \(\bB * \alpha\), is the set of logical consequences of \(\bB\cup \{\alpha \}\), \(\bB * \alpha = \Cn(\bB\cup \{\alpha \}) = \{\beta \in \mathbf{L}: \bB\cup \{\alpha \} \vdash \beta \}\).

Things get interesting when the new information \(\alpha\) contradicts
the old belief set \(\bB\). Here the basic idea is that the
agent’s new belief set \(\bB * \alpha\) should contain the new
information \(\alpha\) and as many of the old beliefs in \(\bB\) as is
allowed by the requirement that the new belief set be consistent and
deductively closed. To state this more precisely, let us introduce the
notion of a *contraction*. To contract a statement \(\alpha\)
from a belief set \(\bB\) is to give up the belief that \(\alpha\) is
true, but to keep as many of the remaining beliefs from \(\bB\) while
ensuring consistency and deductive closure. Where \(\bB \div \alpha\)
is the agent’s new belief set after contracting her old belief
set \(\bB\) by \(\alpha\), the
A(lchourrón)G(ärdenfors)M(akinson) postulates for
contraction \(\div\) can be stated as follows. (Note that \(*\) as
well as \(\div\) are functions from \(\wp(\mathbf{L})\times
\mathbf{L}\) into \(\wp(\mathbf{L})\).)

For every set of sentences \(\bB \subseteq \mathbf{L}\) and any sentences \(\alpha , \beta \in \mathbf{L}\):

\((\div 1)\) | If \(\bB = \Cn(\bB)\), then \(\bB \div \alpha = \Cn(\bB \div \alpha)\) | Deductive Closure |

\((\div 2)\) | \(\bB \div \alpha \subseteq \bB\) | Inclusion |

\((\div 3)\) | If \(\alpha \not\in\) Cn\((\bB)\), then \(\bB\div \alpha = \bB\) | Vacuity |

\((\div 4)\) | If \(\alpha \not\in\) Cn\((\varnothing)\), then \(\alpha \not\in \Cn(\bB\div \alpha)\) | Success |

\((\div 5)\) | If \(\Cn(\{\alpha \}) = \Cn(\{\beta \})\), then \(\bB \div \alpha = \bB \div \beta\) | Preservation |

\((\div 6)\) | If \(\bB = \Cn(\bB)\), then \(\bB \subseteq \Cn((\bB \div \alpha)\cup \{\alpha \})\) | Recovery |

\((\div 7)\) | If \(\bB = \Cn(\bB)\), then \((\bB\div \alpha)\cap(\bB \div \beta) \subseteq \bB \div (\alpha \wedge \beta)\) | |

\((\div 8)\) | If \(\bB = \Cn(\bB)\) and \(\alpha \not\in \bB \div (\alpha \wedge \beta)\), then \(\bB \div (\alpha \wedge \beta) \subseteq \bB \div \alpha\) |

\(\div 1\) says that the contraction of \(\bB\) by \(\alpha\), \(\bB \div \alpha\), should be deductively closed, if \(\bB\) is deductively closed. \(\div 2\) says that a contraction should not give rise to new beliefs not previously held. \(\div 3\) says that the ideal doxastic agent should not change her old beliefs when she gives up a sentence she does not believe to begin with. \(\div 4\) says that, unless \(\alpha\) is tautological, the agent should really give up her belief that \(\alpha\) is true if she contracts by \(\alpha\). \(\div 5\) says that the particular formulation of the sentence the agent gives up should not matter; in other words, the objects of belief should really be propositions rather than sentences. \(\div 6\) says the agent should recover her old beliefs if she first contracts by \(\alpha\) and then adds \(\alpha\) again, provided \(\bB\) is deductively closed. According to \(\div 7\) the agent should not give up more beliefs when contracting by \(\alpha \wedge \beta\) than the ones she gives up when she contracts by \(\alpha\) alone as well as when she contracts by \(\beta\) alone. \(\div 8\) finally requires the agent not to give up more beliefs than necessary: if the agent already gives up \(\alpha\) when she contracts by \(\alpha \wedge \beta\), she should not give up more when contracting by \(\alpha\) than she gives up when contracting by \(\alpha \wedge \beta\). Rott (2001) discusses many further principles and variants of the above.

Given the notion of a contraction we can now state what the
agent’s new belief set, i.e., her old belief set \(\bB\) revised
by the new information \(\alpha\), \(\bB * \alpha\), should look like.
First, the agent should clear \(\bB\) to make it consistent with
\(\alpha\). That is, first the agent should contract \(\bB\) by \(\neg
\alpha\). Then she should simply add \(\alpha\) and close under
(classical) logical consequence. This gives us the agent’s new
belief set \(\bB * \alpha\), her old belief set \(\bB\) revised by
\(\alpha\). The recipe just described is known as the *Levi
identity*:

Revision \(*\) defined in this way satisfies a corresponding list of properties. For every set of sentences \(\bB \subseteq \mathbf{L}\) and any sentences \(\alpha , \beta \in \mathbf{L}\) (where the contradictory sentence \(\bot\) can be defined as the negation of the tautological sentence \(\top\), i.e., \(\neg \top)\):

\((*1)\) | \(\bB * \alpha = \Cn(\bB *\alpha)\) |

\((*2)\) | \(\alpha \in \bB * \alpha\) |

\((*3)\) | If \(\neg \alpha \not\in \Cn(\bB)\), then \(\bB * \alpha = \Cn(\bB\cup \{\alpha \})\) |

\((*4)\) | If \(\neg \alpha \not\in \Cn(\varnothing)\), then \(\bot \not\in \bB *\alpha\) |

\((*5)\) | If \(\Cn(\{\alpha \}) =\Cn(\{\alpha \})\), then \(\bB * \alpha = \bB * \beta\) |

\((*6)\) | If \(\bB = \Cn(\bB)\), then \((\bB * \alpha)\cap \bB = \bB \div \neg \alpha\) |

\((*7)\) | If \(\bB = \Cn(\bB)\), then \(\bB * (\alpha \wedge \beta) \subseteq \Cn(\bB * \alpha \cup \{\beta \})\) |

\((*8)\) | If \(\bB = \Cn(\bB)\) and \(\neg \beta \not\in \bB * \alpha\), then \(\Cn(\bB * \alpha \cup \{\beta \}) \subseteq \bB *(\alpha \wedge \beta)\) |

In standard belief revision theory the new belief set is always
deductively closed, as required by \(*1\). This requirement can be
dropped by using *belief bases* instead of belief sets (Hansson
1999). In standard belief revision theory the new information is
always part of the new belief set, as required by \(*2\).
*Non-prioritized* belief revision relaxes this requirement
(Hansson 1999). The idea is that the idealdoxastic agent might
consider the new information to be too implausible to be added and
decide to reject it; or she might add only a sufficiently plausible
part of the new information; or she might add the new information and
then check for consistency, which makes her give up part or all of the
new information again, because her old beliefs turn out to be more
*entrenched*.

The notion of entrenchment provides the connection to degrees of belief. In order to decide which part of her belief set she wants to give up, belief revision theory equips the ideal doxastic agent agent with an entrenchment ordering. Technically, this is a relation \(\preccurlyeq\) on \(\mathbf{L}\) (i.e., \(\preccurlyeq \subseteq \mathbf{L})\) such that for all \(\alpha , \beta , \gamma\) in \(\mathbf{L}\):

\(({\preccurlyeq}1)\) | If \(\alpha \preccurlyeq \beta\) and \(\beta \preccurlyeq \gamma\), then \(\alpha \preccurlyeq \gamma\) | Transitivity |

\(({\preccurlyeq}2)\) | If \(\alpha \vdash \beta\), then \(\alpha \preccurlyeq \beta\) | Dominance |

\(({\preccurlyeq}3)\) | \(\alpha \preccurlyeq \alpha \wedge \beta\) or \(\beta \preccurlyeq \alpha \wedge \beta\) | Conjunctivity |

\(({\preccurlyeq}4)\) | If \(\bot \not\in \Cn(\bB)\), then \([\alpha \not\in \bB\) if and only if for all \(\beta\) in \(\mathbf{L}: \alpha \preccurlyeq \beta]\) | Minimality |

\(({\preccurlyeq}5)\) | If for all \(\alpha\) in \(\mathbf{L}: \alpha \preccurlyeq \beta\), then \(\beta \in \Cn(\varnothing)\) | Maximality |

\(\bB\) is a fixed set of background beliefs. Given an entrenchment ordering \(\preccurlyeq\) on \(\mathbf{L}\) and letting \(\alpha \preccurlyneq \beta\) hold just in case \(\alpha \preccurlyeq \beta\) and \(\beta \not\preccurlyeq \alpha\), we can define a revision operator \(*\) as follows:

\[ \bB * \alpha = \{\beta \in \bB: \neg \alpha \preccurlyneq \beta \}\cup \{\alpha \} \]Then one can prove the following representation theorem:

**Theorem 1**:

Let \(\mathbf{L}\) be a language, let \(\bB \subseteq \mathbf{L}\) be
a set of sentences, and let \(\alpha \in \mathbf{L}\) be a sentence.
Each entrenchment ordering \(\preccurlyeq\) on \(\mathbf{L}\) induces
a revision operator \(*\) on \(\mathbf{L}\) satisfying
\(*1\)–\(*8\) by defining

For each revision operator \(*\) on \(\mathbf{L}\) satisfying \(*1\)–\(*8\) there is an entrenchment ordering \(\preccurlyeq\) on \(\mathbf{L}\) that induces \(*\) in exactly this way.

Grove (1988) proves an analogous representation theorem for a systems of spheres semantics that generalizes Lewis’ (1973) semantics for counterfactuals. Segerberg (1995) formulates the AGM approach in the framework of dynamic doxastix logic. Lindström & Rabinowicz (1999) extend this to iterated belief revision.

It is, however, fair to say that belief revision theorists distinguish between degrees of belief and entrenchment. Entrenchment, so they say, characterizes the agent’s unwillingness to give up a particular qualitative belief, which may be different from her degree of belief for the respective sentence or proposition. Although this distinction might violate Occam’s razor by introducing an additional doxastic level, it corresponds to Spohn’s parallelism (Spohn 2009, sct. 3) between subjective probabilities and ranking functions as well as Stalnaker’s stance in his (1996, sct. 3). Weisberg (2011, sct. 7) offers a similar distinction.

If the agent’s doxastic state is represented by a regular ranking function \(\varrho\) (on a field of propositions over the set of models \(Mod_{\mathbf{L}}\) for the language \(\mathbf{L}\), as explained in section 1.3) the ordering \(\preccurlyeq_{\varrho}\) that is defined for all \(\alpha , \beta\) in \(\mathbf{L}\) by

\[ \alpha \preccurlyeq_{\varrho} \beta \text{ if and only if } \varrho(Mod(\neg \alpha)) \le \varrho(Mod(\neg \beta)) \]
is an entrenchment ordering for \(\bB = \{\alpha \in \mathbf{L}:
\varrho(Mod(\neg \alpha)) \gt 0\}\). Ranking theory thus covers AGM
belief revision theory as a special case (Rott 2009a defines, among
others, entrenchment orderings and ranking functions for beliefs as
well as for disbeliefs and non-beliefs). It is important to see how
ranking theory goes beyond AGM belief revision theory. In the latter
theory the agent’s prior doxastic state is characterized by a
belief set \(\bB\) together with an entrenchment ordering
\(\preccurlyeq\). If the agent receives new information in the form of
a proposition \(A\), the entrenchment ordering is used to turn the old
belief set into a new one, viz. \(\bB * A\). The agent’s
posterior doxastic state is thus characterized by a belief set only.
The entrenchment ordering itself is not updated. Therefore AGM belief
revision theory cannot handle *iterated* belief changes. To the
extent that belief revision is not simply a one step process, AGM
belief revision theory is thus no theory of belief revision at all.
(The analogous situation in terms of subjective probabilities would be
to characterize the agent’s prior doxastic state by a set of
propositions together with a subjective probability measure, and to
use that measure to update the set of propositions without ever
updating the probability measure itself.)

In ranking theory the agent’s prior doxastic state is characterized by a ranking function \(\varrho\) (on a field over \(Mod_{\mathbf{L}})\). This function determines the agent’s prior belief set \(\bB\), and so there is no need to specify \(\bB\) in addition to \(\varrho\). If the agent receives new information in form of a proposition \(A\), as AGM belief revision theory has it, there are infinitely many ways to update her ranking function that all give rise to the same new belief set \(\bB * A\). Let \(n\) be an arbitrary positive number in \(\bN\cup \{\infty \}\). Then Spohn conditionalization on the partition \(\{A, W \setminus A\}\) with \(n \gt 0\) as new rank for \(W \setminus A\) (and consequently 0 as new rank for \(A), \varrho_{n}'(W \setminus A) = n\), determines a new ranking function \(\varrho_{n}'\) that induces a belief set \(\bB_{n}'\). We have for any two positive numbers \(m, n\) in \(\bN\cup \{\infty \}: \bB_{m}' = \bB_{n}' = \bB * A\), where the latter is the belief set described two paragraphs ago.

Plain conditionalization is the special case of Spohn conditionalization with \(\infty\) as new rank for \(W \setminus A\). The new ranking function obtained in this way is \(\varrho'_{\infty} = \varrho(\cdot \mid A)\), and the belief set it induces is the same \(\bB * A\) as before. However, once the ideal doxastic agent assigns rank \(\infty\) to \(W \setminus A\), she can never get rid of \(A\) again (in the sense that the only information that would allow her to give up her belief that \(A\) is to become certain that \(A\) is false, i.e., assign rank \(\infty\) to \(A\); that in turn would make her doxastic state collapse in the sense of turning it into the tabula rasa ranking that is agnostic with respect to all consistent propositions and so assigns rank 0 to all of them). Just as in probabilism you are stuck with \(A\) once you assign it probability 1, so you are basically stuck with \(A\) once you assign its negation rank \(\infty\). As we have seen, AGM belief revision theory is compatible with always updating in this way. That is one way to see why it cannot handle iterated belief revision. To rule out this behavior one has to impose further constraints on entrenchment orderings. Nayak (1994) and Boutilier (1996) and Darwiche & Pearl (1997) and others do so by postulating constraints compatible with, but not yet implying ranking theory (see Rott 2009b, who provides an excellent overview of qualitative and comparative approaches to iterated belief revision extending the AGM approach). Hild & Spohn (2008) argue that one really has to go all the way to ranking functions in order to adequately deal with iterated belief revision. Stalnaker (2009) critically discusses these approaches and argues that one needs to distinguish different kinds of information, including meta-information about the agent’s own beliefs and revision policies as well as about the sources of her information. For more on AGM belief revision theory, iterated belief revisions, and ranking functions see Huber (2013a, 2013b). For a discussion of belief revision theory in the setting of possibility theory see Dubois & Prade (2009).

### 3.5 Nonmonotonic Reasoning

Let us finally turn to *nonmonotonic reasoning* (for more
information see the entry on
non-monotonic logic).
A premise \(\beta\) classically entails a conclusion \(\gamma , \beta
\vdash \gamma\), just in case \(\gamma\) is true in every model or
truth value assignment in which \(\beta\) is true. The classical
consequence relation \(\vdash\) (conceived of as a relation between
two sentences rather than as a relation between a set of sentences,
the premises, and a sentence, the conclusion) is
*non-ampliative* in the sense that the conclusion of a
classically valid argument does not convey information that goes
beyond the information contained in the premise.

\(\vdash\) has the following *monotonicity* property. For any
sentences \(\alpha , \beta , \gamma\) in \(\mathbf{L}\):

That is, if \(\gamma\) follows from \(\alpha\), then \(\gamma\)
follows from any sentence \(\alpha \wedge \beta\) that is at least as
logically strong as \(\alpha\). However, everyday reasoning often is
ampliative. When Sophia sees the thermometer at 85° Fahrenheit she
infers that it is not too cold to have dinner in the garden. If Sophia
additionally sees that the thermometer is placed above the oven where
she is boiling her pasta, she will not infer this any more.
*Nonmonotonic reasoning* is the study of reasonable consequence
relations which violate monotonicity (Gabbay 1985, Kraus & Lehmann
& Magidor 1990, Makinson 1989; for an overview see Makinson
1994).

For a fixed set of background beliefs \(\bB\), the revision operators \(*\) from the previous paragraphs give rise to nonmonotonic consequence relations \(\dproves\) as follows (Makinson & Gärdenfors 1991):

\[ \alpha \dproves \beta \text{ if and only if } \beta \in \bB * \alpha. \]Nonmonotonic consequence relations on a language \(\mathbf{L}\) are supposed to satisfy the following principles from Kraus & Lehmann & Magidor (1990).

(KLM1) | \(\alpha \dproves \alpha\) | Reflexivity |

(KLM2) | If \(\vdash \alpha \leftrightarrow \beta\) and \(\alpha \dproves \gamma\), then \(\beta \dproves \gamma\) | Left Logical Equivalence |

(KLM3) | If \(\vdash \alpha \rightarrow \beta\) and \(\gamma \dproves \alpha\), then \(\gamma \dproves \beta\) | Right Weakening |

(KLM4) | If \(\alpha \wedge \beta \dproves \gamma\) and \(\alpha \dproves \beta\), then \(\alpha \dproves \gamma\) | Cut |

(KLM5) | If \(\alpha \dproves \beta\) and \(\alpha \dproves \gamma\), then \(\alpha \wedge \beta \dproves \gamma\) | Cautious Monotonicity |

(KLM6) | If \(\alpha \dproves \gamma\) and \(\beta \dproves \gamma\), then \(\alpha \vee \beta \dproves \gamma\) | Or |

The standard interpretation of a nonmonotonic consequence relation \(\dproves\) is “If …, normally …”. Normality among worlds is spelt out in terms of preferential models \(\langle S, l, \preccurlyeq \rangle\) for \(\mathbf{L}\), where \(S\) is a set of states, and \(l: S \rightarrow Mod_{\mathbf{L}}\) is a function that assigns each state \(s\) in \(S\) its world \(l(s)\) in \(Mod_{\mathbf{L}}\). The abnormality relation \(\preccurlyeq\) is a strict partial order on \(Mod_{\mathbf{L}}\) that satisfies a certain smoothness condition. For our purposes it suffices to note that the order among the worlds that is induced by a pointwise ranking function is such an abnormality relation. Given a preferential model \(\langle S, l, \preccurlyeq \rangle\) we can define a nonmonotonic consequence relation \(\dproves\) as follows. Let \(\overline{\alpha}\) be the set of states in whose worlds \(\alpha\) is true, i.e., \(\overline{\alpha} = \{s \in S: l(s) \vDash \alpha \}\), and define

\[ \alpha \dproves \beta \text{ if and only if for all } s \in \overline{\alpha}: (\text{if for all } t \in \overline{\alpha}: t \not\preccurlyeq s, \text{ then } l(s) \vDash \beta). \]That is, \(\alpha \dproves \beta\) holds just in case \(\beta\) is true in the least abnormal among the \(\alpha\)-worlds. Then one can prove the following representation theorem:

**Theorem 2**:

Let \(\mathbf{L}\) be a language, let \(\bB \subseteq \mathbf{L}\) be
a set of sentences, and let \(\alpha \in \mathbf{L}\) be a sentence.
Each preferential model \(\langle S, l, \rangle\) for \(\mathbf{L}\)
induces a nonmonotonic consequence relation \(\dproves\) on
\(\mathbf{L}\) satisfying KLM1–6 by defining: \(\alpha \dproves
\beta\) if and only if for all \(s \in \overline{\alpha}\), if for all
\(t \in \overline{\alpha}: t \not\preccurlyeq s\), then \(l(s) \vDash
\beta\). For each nonmonotonic consequence relation \(\dproves\) on
\(\mathbf{L}\) satisfying KLM1–6 there is a preferential model
\(\langle S, l, \preccurlyeq \rangle\) for \(\mathbf{L}\) that induces
\(\dproves\) in exactly this way.

Whereas the classical consequence relation preserves truth in all logically possible worlds, nonmonotonic consequence relations preserve truth in all least abnormal worlds. For a different semantics in terms of inhibition nets see Leitgeb (2004). Makinson (2009) contains an excellent presentation of ideas underlying nonmonotonic reasoning and its relation to degrees of belief.

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## Other Internet Resources

- Heinemann, Frank (ms), “Relative Probabilities”, unpublished manuscript.
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### Acknowledgments

I am grateful to Branden Fitelson, Alan Hájek, and Wolfgang Spohn for their comments and suggestions. I have used material from Huber (2009) for this entry.