## Notes to Formal Epistemology

1. Strictly speaking, this should
read, “For any proposition *that has a well-defined
probability at all*…”. For technical reasons we
won’t go into here, some propositions cannot have any
well-defined probability, at least not on the standard approach to
probability.

2. We could use a different scale, from 0 to 2 for example. But the math would end up messier.

3. Despite appearing trivial or
obvious, this is actually a substantive assumption. Certainly some
things *appear* more probable than some tautologies. For
example, that I have hands seems massively probable to me, whereas
certain long and complicated tautologies will be hard for me to
identify as tautologies.

4. From the three axioms stated, we
can prove that the same rule works for a three-part breakdown, a
four-part breakdown, and so on, for any finite
number \(n\). It does not follow from these
axioms, however, that the same rule holds for an infinite
breakdown. Consequently, many authors replace our third axiom with an
infinitary version called *Countable Additivity*. See the entry
on Interpretations of
Probability for more.

5. It was previously known as “The Principle of Insufficient Reason”, but was renamed by Keynes (1921) to avoid the impression of arbitrariness.