# Logics for Analyzing Power in Normal Form Games

*First published Wed Jun 14, 2017; substantive revision Tue Aug 1, 2017*

This entry discusses the use of mathematical languages to express and
analyze the formal properties of power in normal form games. The
mathematical languages discussed in this entry will be referred to as
**logics**, and classified according to their ability to
express game-related concepts.

The material in this entry will be limited to the logical analysis of strategies and preferences of (groups of) individuals in normal form games. It will not cover the use of game theory to study logical languages nor the role of epistemic concepts in strategic decisions. It will also not cover aspects of sequential decisions-making, typical of strategic reasoning in extensive games. An account of those can be found in the related entries logic and games, epistemic foundations of game theory (see also van Benthem, Pacuit, & Roy 2011 and van Benthem 2014).

- 1. The Logic Underneath Normal Form Games
- 2. The Basic Ingredients
- 3. Analyzing Power
- 4. Conclusions: On the Right Level of Analysis
- Bibliography
- Academic Tools
- Other Internet Resources
- Related Entries

## 1. The Logic Underneath Normal Form Games

A **(normal-form) game** is a mathematical description of
the relation between a set of **individuals** (or groups
of individuals) and a set of potential **outcomes**.
Individuals choose, **independently and concurrently**, a
subset of the outcomes, with the final outcome being selected from the
combination of each choice. *Independently* means that
individuals’ choices do not influence one another.
*Concurrently* means that each individual’s choices are
taken not knowing the other players’ choices. Each individual is
assumed to have a preference over the set of outcomes, i.e., he or she
likes some outcomes more than others, and typically assumed to know
the other individuals’ potential choices and preferences,
adjusting their decisions accordingly.

Games are used to model all sorts of situations, ranging from animal behavior to international conflict resolution (Osborne & Rubinstein 1994). A useful application for the purpose of this entry is collective decision-making, an instance of which is going to be the working example throughout.

**Example 1: (The treaty of Rome)**

The treaty of Rome (1958–1973) established the European Economic Community. According to Article 148 of the Treaty, acts of the Council (one of the main legislative institutions) required for their adoption:

- 12 votes (if the act was proposed by the Commission), or
- 12 votes by at least 4 member states (if the act was not proposed by the Commission).

The values above refer to the EU-6, the founding member states. The treaty allocated the votes as follows:

- 4 votes: France, Germany, Italy;
- 2 votes: Belgium, The Netherlands;
- 1 vote: Luxembourg.

This scenario can be described as a game.

There are six players, the Countries:

France, Germany, Italy, Belgium, The Netherlands and Luxembourg.

They vote on one issue at the time. Issues can be binary, e.g., the adoption of a border-protection scheme, or multi-valued, e.g., how many millions should be spent on the adoption of a border-protection scheme.

Countries might have *preferences* over the outcome of the vote
or even over the other Countries’ specific vote, and they
usually vote without *knowing* how the others have voted.

Often times, these games are such that no participant is, alone,
capable of deciding the final outcome, but, in some cases, they could
cooperate and agree on a *joint strategy*.

Depending on players’ preferences, knowledge and capabilities some outcomes will be more likely to be chosen. In order to understand which ones, game theory has devised solution concepts, formally functions from the set of games to the set of outcomes in each of these games, which describe players’ rationality in mathematical terms. Solution concepts, as we will see later, can be succinctly expressed in simple and well-behaved logics.

Next we describe games as mathematical structures, emphasizing various key ingredients (e.g., the possibility of forming coalitions, the possibility to take decisions in time etc.) and the best suited languages to express them.

## 2. The Basic Ingredients

Formally, games consist of a finite set of players \(N=\{1,2, \ldots, n\}\) and a possibly infinite set of outcomes \(W=\{w_1, w_2, \ldots, w_k, \ldots \}\).

**Example 2:** In the example above the set of players
*N* is {France, Germany, Italy, Belgium, The Netherlands,
Luxembourg}. If we consider the issue adoption of a
border-protection scheme, there are two outcomes: yes and no,
i.e., \(W = \{\mbox{yes, no}\}\). If we instead consider the issue
millions spent on border-protection scheme
there is a potentially infinite outcome space, i.e., \(W =
\{\textrm{0M}, \textrm{1M}, \textrm{2M}, \ldots \}\). It is possible
to have a set of outcomes that is even refined further, for instance
specifying the way players have voted. In this case the outcome in
which France vote yes, the others vote no, and the result is no, would
be different from the outcome in which Italy vote yes, the others vote
no, and the result is no, although the result of the vote is the same.
What is important to emphasize is that each set of outcomes comes with
a *level of description* of what is happening in the underlying
interaction. There is no a priori right or wrong level of description,
the choice depends on the properties of the game that one is
interested in.

On top of players and outcomes, games come with two more relations:

- a
**preference relation**, denoted \(\succeq\), describing players’ preferences over outcomes; - an
**action relation**, denoted \(E\), describing the outcomes that players or groups of players are able to impose or, conversely, rule out;

An important relation in games is knowledge, which formally describes what players know of the game and their opponents. This relation is sometimes given explicitly, other times left implicit. The present entry will not make the relation explicit, but will rather incorporate it in the formalization of players’ rationality.

Both the preference and the action relations collect families of individual relations, one per player. The preference relation, for instance, is broken down into a family \(\{\succeq_i\}_{i\in N}\), describing the preference over outcomes for each of the individuals, while the action relation collects a family \(\{E_C\}_{C\subseteq N}\) each describing what a specific group of players can achieve.

Overall, a game can be seen as a mathematical structure

\[(\mathcal{N}, W, \succeq, E)\]where \(\mathcal{N}\) is the set of players, typically finite, \(W\) the set of outcomes, \(\succeq\) the preference relation and \(E\) the action relation.

This mathematical structure is also known as a **relational
structure** (Blackburn, Rijke, & Venema 2001), which is the
set-theoretic equivalent of a so-called **modal logic**
(Blackburn et al. 2001), a mathematical language that is well-suited
to express the mathematical properties of relations. A relational
structure will henceforth be denoted \(F\), which stands for
**frame**.

The last ingredient that we need, in order to link relational
structures and modal logics, is the specification of a set of atomic
propositions Atoms, which expresses the
relevant properties of the outcomes we are interested in. This set is
usually taken to be
countable^{[1]}
and is associated to outcomes by means of a **valuation
function**, i.e., a function of the form

associating to each outcome the set of propositional atoms that are true at that outcome.

A tuple \((F,V)\) will be referred to as **model**, which
will be denoted \(M\).

The relations in a game structure, which are relative to individual players (and groups), will formally be described in connection with the main modal logics used to express their properties, at different levels of description and granularity.

The following paragraph collects the background technical notions
needed to interpret the modal languages used in this entry. The reader
already acquainted with modal logic can skip it. For a more in depth
exploration one can consult the related entry on
modal logic
(Garson 2014). Well-known classic textbooks are *Modal Logic: An
Introduction* (Chellas 1980), which focuses on non-normal modal
logics, and *Modal Logic* (Blackburn et al. 2001), which
focuses instead on a more mathematical treatment of normal modal
logics.^{[2]}

**Modal Logic: background notions:** A **modal
logic** is an extension of the language of propositional logic
with a set of modal operators \(\Box_1,\ldots , \Box_n, \ldots\),
defined on a countable set of atomic propositions
\(\texttt{Atoms}=\{p_1,p_2, \ldots \}\), over which the set of
*well-formed formulas* is inductively built (for a mathematical
treatment of logic and induction see for instance Dalen 1980). Each
well-formed formula \(\varphi\) of a modal language \(\mathcal{L}\),
henceforth simply called *formula*, is constructed using the
following grammar:

where \(\Box_i \in \{\Box_1, \ldots, \Box_n, \ldots\}\) and \(p \in \texttt{Atoms}\).

A model for this language is a structure \(M = ((W, R_1, \ldots, R_n,
\ldots), V)\), consisting of a set of **worlds** or
**states** or **outcomes** \(W\); an
**accessibility relation** \(R_i\) for each modal
operator \(\Box_i\), defined via so-called neighborhood functions
(Chellas 1980), i.e., functions \(R_i: W \to 2^{2^{W}}\); and a
**valuation function** \(V: \texttt{Atoms} \to 2^{W}\),
which assigns to each atomic proposition a subset of \(W\), with the
idea that each atomic proposition is assigned to the set of worlds at
which this proposition is true.

As a general convention, a multimodal language with modalities
\(\Box_1\), …, \(\Box_n\), … will be denoted by
\(\mathcal{L}^{f(\Box_1),\ldots, f(\Box_n),\ldots}\), where the
function \(f\) associates to each modality its intuitive shorthand.
Let \(\Delta\) be a modal language consisting of modalities
\(\Box_1\), …, \(\Box_n\), … and let \(M = ((W, R_1,
\ldots, R_n, \ldots), V )\) be a model for this language. The
**satisfaction relation** of a formula \(\varphi \in
\Delta\) with respect to a pair \((M,w)\), where \(w \in W\), is
defined according to the following truth conditions:

where \(\varphi^{M}=\{w \in W \mid M,w \models \varphi\}\) is called
the **truth set** or the **extension** of
\(\varphi\).

A formula \(\varphi\) of a modal language \(\Delta\): **holds at
a state** \(w\) of model \(M\) whenever \(M,w \models
\varphi\); is **valid in a model** \(M\), denoted
\(\models_{M} \varphi\), if and only if \(M,w \models \varphi\) for
every \(w \in W\), where \(W\) is the domain of \(M\); is
**valid in a class of models** \(\mathcal{M}\), denoted
\(\models_{\mathcal{M}} \varphi\), if and only if it is valid in every
\(M \in \mathcal{M}\); is **valid in a frame** \({F}\),
denoted \(\models_{{F}} \varphi\), if and only if for every valuation
\(V\) we have that \(\models_{(F,V)} \varphi\); is **valid in a
class of frames** \(\mathcal{F}\), denoted
\(\models_{\mathcal{F}} \varphi\), if and only if it is valid in every
\(F \in \mathcal{F}\).

The set of formulas of \(\Delta\) that are valid in a class of models
\(\mathcal{M}\) is denoted \(\Delta_{\mathcal{M}}\) (for frames the
denotation is \(\Delta_{\mathcal{F}}\)). For a set of formulas
\(\Sigma\), we write \(M,w \models \Sigma\) to say that \(M,w \models
\sigma\), for all \(\sigma\in \Sigma\). We say that a set of formulas
\(\Sigma\) **semantically entails** a formula \(\varphi\)
in a class of models \(\mathcal{M}\), denoted \(\Sigma
\models_{\mathcal{M}} \varphi\), if for every \(M \in \mathcal{M}\) we
have that \(\models_{M} \Sigma\) implies \(\models_{M} \varphi\).

A modal rule

\[\frac{\varphi_1,\ldots ,\varphi_n }{\psi}\]
is **sound** in a class of models \(\mathcal{M}\) if
\(\varphi_1,\ldots ,\varphi_n \models_{\mathcal{M}} \psi\).

Recall, following Chellas (1980), that a modal logic \(\Delta\) is
called **classical** if it is closed under the rule of
equivalence, i.e., for each \(\Box\) in the language \(\Delta\) we
have:

It is called **monotonic** if it is classical and it is
moreover closed under the rule of monotonicity, i.e., for each
\(\Box\) in the language \(\Delta\) we have:

It is called **normal** if it is monotonic, it is closed
under the rule of generalization and contains the \(K\) axiom, i.e.,
for each \(\Box\) in the formulas of \(\Delta\) we have

and \(\Delta\) contains \(\Box(\varphi \to \psi) \to (\Box \varphi \to \Box \psi)\).

A normal modal logic can be interpreted in structures of the form \(M
= ((W, R'_1, \ldots, R'_n, \ldots), V)\), where each \(R'_i\) is a
principal
filter^{[3]}
or, alternatively, it is of the form \(R'_i: W \to 2^{W}\).

### 2.1 Preferences

Recall the relational structure \((\mathcal{N},W, \succeq, E)\) and consider the relation \(\succeq\). This relation compactly represents a family \(\{\succeq_i\}_{i\in N}\) of individual preference relations each indexed with a player.

Formally, a **preference** for player \(i\) is a relation

The idea is that if two outcomes \(w\) and \(w'\) are such that \((w,w')\in \succeq_i\) then player \(i\) considers outcome \(w\) at least as good as outcome \(w'\). The fact that \((w,w')\in \succeq_i\) will be abbreviated \(w \succeq_i w'\). Its inverse is the relation \(\preceq_i\),which holds for \((w,w')\) whenever \(w' \succeq_i w\). Its strict counterpart is the relation \(\succ_i\), which holds for \((w,w')\) whenever \(w \succeq_i w'\) and it is not the case that \(w' \succeq_i w\). Moreover \(w \sim_i w'\) denotes the fact that \(w \succeq_i w'\) and \(w' \succeq_i w\), meaning that \(i\) is indifferent between \(w\) and \(w'\).

**Example 3:** Let us go back to our main example.
Typically Countries have preferences over the outcome of the decision,
e.g., Italy think we should spend between 5 and 10 million euros for
the scheme, Germany think we should spend between 1 and 2, Belgium
between 4 and 5, Luxembourg, The Netherlands and France exactly 5.
This means, for instance, that Italy’s preference relation is
such that \(w \succ_{\textrm{Italy}} w'\) whenever \(\textrm{5M} \leq
w \leq \textrm{10M}\) and either \(w'>\textrm{10M}\) or \(0\leq
w'<\textrm{5M}\). What about all other couples of outcomes? In the
simplest case Italy are indifferent between them. So \(w
\sim_{\textrm{Italy}} w'\), otherwise. However, we could also assume a
more complex preference. For instance, Italy would like to spend as
much money as possible within their desired budget. In this case the
preference relation is: \(w \succ_{\textrm{Italy}} w'\) whenever
\(\textrm{5M} \leq w \leq \textrm{10M}\) and either
\(w'>\textrm{10M}\) or \(0\leq w'<\textrm{5M}\), \(w
\succ_{\textrm{Italy}} w'\) whenever \(\textrm{5M} \leq w' < w \leq
\textrm{10M}\) while \(w \sim_{\textrm{Italy}} w'\), otherwise. Not
all outcomes of a vote are going to reach an agreement. We then, for
technical purposes, define an auxiliary outcome \(w^{d}\), interpreted
as a disagreement outcome. The idea is that this is an outcome of the
vote that does not reach any consensus. We assume that any agreement
is strictly better for any player than disagreement, i.e., \(w
\succ_{{i}} w'\) whenever \(w'=w^{*}\) and \(w\neq w^{*}\), for each
\(i\in N\).

Properties of these relations can be expressed by means of modal logics. To do so we introduce modal operators \(\Diamond^{\preceq}_i\), \(\Diamond^{\prec}_i\) and \(\Diamond^{\sim}_i\) for each of the corresponding relations.

The interpretation, for \(R \in \{\preceq, \prec, \sim\}\), is as follows:

\[ M,w \models \Diamond^{R}_i \varphi\enskip \mbox{ if and only if }\enskip M,w^{\prime} \models \varphi, \mbox{ for some } w^{\prime} \mbox{ with } w R_i w^{\prime}\]The relations in question often come with extra properties. For instance, \(\preceq_i\) is usually taken to satisfy the following:

- reflexivity i.e., \(\forall w\in W, i \in N,\) we have that: \(w \preceq_i w\);
- transitivity i.e., \(\forall w_1, w_2, w_3 \in W, i \in N,\) we have that: (\(w_1 \preceq_i w_2\) and \(w_2 \preceq_i w_3\)) implies that \(w_1 \preceq_i w_3\).
- connectedness i.e., \(\forall w_1, w_2 \in W, i \in N,\) we have that: either \(w_1 \preceq_1 w_2\) or \(w_2 \preceq_i w_1\).

**The** first two properties can be characterized in a
normal modal logic with one modal operator per player, by means of the
following axioms and validities.

**Proposition 1**

However this is not the case for connectedness, as modal languages
such as this one can only talk about *local* properties of
relations (Blackburn et al. 2001).

To do so we need to introduce a special type of operator: the universal (or global) modality (Goranko & Passy 1992). This modality expresses properties of all the states in a domain \(W\) of a model \(M\) and it is interpreted as follows.

\[ M,w \models A\varphi \enskip\mbox{ if and only if }\enskip M,w^{\prime} \models \varphi, \mbox{ for all } w^{\prime} \in W\]The formula \(\neg A \neg \varphi\) will be abbreviated \(E\varphi\). The symbol \(E\) is the existential dual of \(A\) and it indicates that a certain formula holds at some state in the model. With the global modality we have a genuine addition of expressivity (together with further costs and further gains, as shown in Goranko & Passy 1992), therefore we can express validity in a model by means of expressing truth in a world, witness the fact that \(M,w \models A \varphi\) holds if and only if \( \models_M \varphi\) does.

Recall that a relation \(R\) is trichotomous if and only if for all \(x,y\in W\) it is either the case that \(xRy, yRx\) or \(y=x\). We can use a combination of preference and global modalities to obtain the following frame correspondence.

**Proposition 2**
Let \(F\) be a frame. We have that:

\(\models_F (\varphi \wedge \Box^{\preceq}_i \psi) \to A(\psi \vee \varphi \vee \Diamond^{\preceq}_i \varphi)\) if and only if \(\preceq_i\) is trichotomous

An alternative and possibly more intuitive formula that can be used instead is, for \(p,q\) being atomic propositions:

\[E p \land E q \to E(p \land q) \lor E(p \land \Diamond^{\preceq}_i q) \lor E(q \land \Diamond^{\preceq}_i p)\]Trichotomy, transitivity and reflexivity of \(\preceq_i\) are equivalent to the relation being a weak linear order, and thus being connected.

The relation \(\prec_i\), i.e., the relation of strict preference, can be defined in terms of \(\preceq_i\). But \(\prec_i\) satisfies the following property:

- irreflexivity i.e., \(\forall w\in W, i \in N,\) we have that: it is not the case that \(w \prec_i w\);

Irreflexivity is not definable in basic modal logic (Blackburn et al.
2001). However if the atomic propositions are powerful enough to tell
each outcome apart, then irreflexivity becomes definable. For instance
let \(w_k\) be a variable identifying world \(w_k\).^{[4]}
We have the following.

**Proposition 3**

Finally, the indifference relation \(\sim\) satisfies the properties of reflexivity, transitivity and symmetry. While reflexivity and transitivity are defined analogously to the previous modalities, symmetry is defined as follows.

- symmetry i.e., \(\forall w_1, w_2 \in W, i \in N,\) we have that: \(w_1 \sim_i w_2\) implies that \(w_2 \sim_i w_1\).

While the axioms for the first two are similar to the ones for \(\preceq_i\), symmetry is characterized as follows

**Proposition 4**

The three properties above say, together, that each \(\sim_i\) is
mathematically an **equivalence relation**, i.e., a relation such that

is a partition of \(W\). Each element of this partition is an
**indifference class** for player \(i\), i.e., a set of
outcomes he or she is indifferent to.

The logic of equivalence relations, such as \(\sim_i\), is also known as the \({\bf S5}\) system.

**Preferences and utilities** Because of their widespread
use in game theory, an important class of preference relations are
those that *correspond* to numerical values, or utility
functions.

A **utility function** is a function

mapping outcomes to real numbers, representing *how much* a
player values a certain state.

Utility functions naturally induce preference relations, in the following sense.

**Definition 5**
Let \(u\) be a utility function. We say that \(\succeq^*_i\)
**corresponds to** \(u\) if the following holds:

Notice how every weak linear order over a finite set of outcomes corresponds to some utility function.

We refer to the related entries on preferences (Hansson & Grune-Yanoff 2011) and decision-theory (Steele & Stefansson 2015) for a more detailed analysis on the role of preferences in philosophy and decision theory.

### 2.2 Choices

A game is also a description of what players can achieve, on their own or within coalitions. To formalize this we use effectivity functions, an abstract model of power introduced to study voting strategies in committees (Moulin & Peleg 1982).

An **effectivity function** (Moulin & Peleg 1982) is
a function

associating to each group of players a set of sets of outcomes.

The idea is that, whenever it is the case that \(X\in E(C)\), then
coalition \(C\) is able to decide that the outcome of the game lies
inside the set \(X\), and can therefore rule out the outcomes \(W
\setminus X\) from being eventually chosen. In other words \(X\) is
*within the power* of coalition \(C\).

Effectivity functions are **closed under supersets**,
i.e., we have that \(X\in E(C)\) and \(X\subseteq Y \subseteq W\)
imply that \(Y \in E(C)\). In other words, if \(X\) is within the
power of coalition \(C\) then so is each of \(X\)’s supersets.
From this, notice, it follows that if an effectivity function of a
certain coalition is not empty then it always contains the set of all
outcomes.

For \(\mathcal{X} \subseteq {2^{W}}\) we denote \(\mathcal{X}^{+}\)
its superset closure.

**Example 4:** Going back to the main example, consider
the power of each individual Country. Because of the rules of the
game, no Country is alone in position to rule out any outcome.

Resorting to effectivity functions: for each \(i\in N\), we have that \(E(\{i\}) = \{W\}\).

This is however also the case for coalitions that are not big enough. For instance, take all coalitions of at least two Countries that can be formed between The Netherlands, Belgium and Luxembourg.

\[\begin{align*} E(\{\mbox{Luxembourg, Belgium}\}) &= \\ E(\{\mbox{Luxembourg, The Netherlands}\}) &= \\ E(\{\mbox{Belgium, The Netherlands}\}) &= \\ E(\{\mbox{Luxembourg, Belgium, The Netherlands}\}) &= \{W\}. \end{align*} \]Because their total weight sums to at most to 5 votes, they are not, on their own, able to settle for or rule out any possible agreement. In fact, for acts proposed by the Commission, each coalition \(C\) whose voting weight is not at least 12 has the same effectivity function \(E(C) = \{W\}\).

For the other coalitions, the situation is different. Consider for instance the coalition made by France, Germany and Italy, which, together, have a voting weight of 12. For them we have that:

\[E(\{\textrm{France, Germany, Italy}\}) = \{\{w\} \mid w \in W\}^{+}\]This means that the three members can, on their own, decide the outcome of the vote. This is true for every coalition of voting weight 12 or more.

What about the acts not proposed by the Commission? For them let us use a different effectivity function, which we label \(E^{*}\).

In this case the winning coalition has to consist of at least four members.

So \(E^{*}(\{\mbox{France, Germany, Italy}\}) = \{W\}\) while \(E^{*}(\{\)France, Germany, Belgium, The Netherlands\(\}) = \{\{w\} \mid w \in W\}^{+}\).

In general, it holds that \(E(C)=E^{*}(C)\) whenever \(|C|\geq 4\). Because of the properties of the voting game, we also have that \(E(C)=E^{*}(C)\) whenever \(|C|\leq 2\). The difference is made by coalitions of size 3: with \(E^{*}\), they can never achieve more than \(\{W\}\), while with \(E\) they can achieve \(\{\{w\} \mid w \in W\}^{+}\), if their voting power is at least 12. Notice that Luxembourg is irrelevant when it comes to bills proposed by the Commission, i.e., \(E(C) = E(C \cup \textrm{ Luxembourg})\). This is not the case for the other bills, as we have observed.

Properties of effectivity functions can be expressed in modal logic.
To do so it is important to observe that each effectivity function
corresponds to a (non-normal) relation in a relational structure. So
what effectivity functions do is to induce a special kind of
neighborhood structure, which we refer to as *Coalition
Model*.

**Definition 6 [Coalition
Models]** A *Coalition Model* is a triple \((W,E,
V)\) where:

- \(W\) is a nonempty set of states;
- \(E: W \longrightarrow (2^{N} \longrightarrow 2^{2^W})\) is a
*dynamic*effectivity function; - \(V: W \longrightarrow 2^{\texttt{Atoms}}\) is a valuation function.

As the reader will notice, dynamic effectivity functions allow each
state to possibly have different power distributions among coalitions.
This is *strictu sensu* irrelevant for the treatment of power
in normal form games
(Section 3),
where the effectivity functions associated to outcomes could as well
be taken to be equivalent everywhere in the model, but the model is
general enough to treat extensive and repeated interaction, where the
sequential structure of the interaction is defined explicitly. We will
usually abbreviate \(E(w)(C)\) as \(E_w(C)\) or even \(E(C)\) when
clear from the context.

The language used to talk about Coalition Models is **Coalition
Logic** (Pauly 2001), a non-normal modal logic to express
choices of groups of players. Coalition Logic is an extension of
propositional logic with \(|2^{N}|\) modalities of the form \([C]\),
so a modal operator each indexed with a coalition.

The satisfaction relation of the formulas of the form \([C]\varphi\) with respect to a pair \(M,w\) is defined as follows:

\[M,w\models [C]\varphi \enskip\textrm{if and only if}\enskip \varphi^M\in E_w(C) \]where, \(\varphi^M = \{w\in W \mid M,w\models\varphi\}\).

Intuitively \(\varphi^M\in E_w(C)\) means that coalition \(C\) is able to achieve property \(\varphi\).

As closure under superset, or **outcome monotonicity**,
is taken to be a property of all effectivity functions, the rule of
monotonicity is valid in Coalition Logic, which is therefore a
monotonic modal logic (Hansen 2003).

The rule of monotonicity takes this form for each \(C\subseteq N\):

\[\frac{\varphi \to \psi}{[C]\varphi \to [C]\psi}\]Intuitively, if \(C\) is able to achieve \(\varphi\) and we have that \(\varphi\) implies \(\psi\), then \(C\) is also able to achieve \(\psi\).

**Mathematical properties of power** Apart from outcome
monotonicity, many other properties can be deemed necessary to model
coalitional power in games. For instance an effectivity function has
the property of:

- liveness i.e., \(\emptyset \not\in E(C)\), for each \(C\subseteq N\);
- safety i.e., \(W \in E(C)\), for each \(C\subseteq N\);
- regularity i.e., \(X \in E(C)\) implies that \(\overline{X} \not\in E(\overline{C})\), for each \(C\subseteq N, X \subseteq W\);
*N*-maximality i.e., \(\overline{X} \in E(\emptyset)\) implies that \({X} \in E(N)\) and \(X \subseteq W\);- superadditivity i.e., \(X\in E(C)\) and \(Y \in E(D)\) implies that \(X\cap Y \in E(C \cup D)\), for each \(C\), \(D \subseteq N\), \(C \cap D = \emptyset\), \(X,Y \subseteq W\);
- coalition monotonicity i.e., \(X \in E(C)\) implies that \(X \in E(D)\), for each \(C\subseteq D \subseteq N\), \(X \subseteq W\);
- well-foundedness i.e., \(X \in E(N)\) implies that \(\{x\} \in E(N)\), for some \(x \in X\), for each \(X \subseteq W\).

An effectivity function is called **playable** (Pauly
2001) if it has liveness, safety, *N*-maximality and
superadditivity. It is called **truly playable**
(Goranko, Jamroga, & Turrini 2013) if it is playable and
well-founded. Observe that if \(W\) is finite, an effectivity function
is playable if and only if it is truly playable (Goranko et al.
2013).

True playability is a fundamental property of effectivity functions, and connects one-shot coalitional games to one-shot strategic games, as will be clear later.

**Example 5:** The
effectivity functions of our working example are all truly
playable.

In neighborhood structures, relations between set-theoretical and logical properties are often immediate and standard correspondence results between class of frames and neighborhood functions (Chellas 1980) can be automatically used for Coalition Logic.

Coalition Logic is in fact expressive enough to characterize all the constraints mentioned so far.

**Proposition 7**
Let \(F=(W,E)\) be a Coalition Frame, and \(C,C^{\prime}, C''\) be
coalitions, such that \(C \cap C'=\emptyset\) and \(C \subseteq C''\).
The following results hold:

- \(\models_F [C] \varphi \to \neg [\overline{C}]\neg \varphi\) if and only if \(E\) is regular;
- \(\models_F [C]\top\) if and only if \(E\) has safety;
- \(\models_F [C] \varphi \to [C'']\varphi\) if and only if \(E\) is coalition monotonic;
- \(\models_F \neg [C] \bot\) if and only if \(E\) has liveness;
- \(\models_F \neg [\emptyset] \neg \varphi \to [N]\varphi\) if and
only if \(E\) is
*N*-maximal; - \(\models_F [C^{\prime}] \varphi \wedge [C]\psi \to [C^{\prime} \cup C](\varphi \wedge \psi)\) if and only if \(E\) is superadditive;
- \(\varphi \to \psi \models_F [C]\varphi \to [C]\psi\) if and only if \(E\) is outcome monotonic.

For the proofs, consult Pauly 2001.

Correspondence results allow us to distinguish by modal means a number of class of frames. However expressivity of the modal operators strongly limit the capacity of the language to discern classes of structures. To this extent the reader should notice that the logics of both playable and truly playable effectivity frames share the fact that \(\models_F [\emptyset]\top\). However this proposition, whose interpretation is that for each \(w\in W, \{W\} \in E_w(\emptyset)\), is not sufficient to make a formal distinction between \(E_w(\emptyset)\) in the two different classes of effectivity functions.

Along these lines, the following result tells us that Coalition Logic is also good enough to reason about (or, if you prefer, too weak to distinguish) truly playable effectivity functions.

**Theorem 8** (Goranko et
al. 2013) Let \(\mathcal{P}\) be the class of playable frames
and \(\mathcal{P}^{*}\) the class of truly playable ones. Then, for
every formula of Coalition Logic \(\varphi\)

This follows from the fact that Playable Coalition Logic has the
finite model property (Pauly 2001) and, in finite models, playable
effectivity functions are truly
playable.^{[5]}

As pointed out earlier on, this entry will only mention how knowledge is implicit in game structures but will not delve into the study of epistemic preconditions of rational play. Related entries devoted to epistemic logic (Hendricks & Symons 2006), dynamic epistemic logic (Baltag & Renne 2016), and in particular epistemic game theory (Pacuit & Roy 2015) explore in depth the role of knowledge in decision-making. A treatment of modal logics for games which focuses instead on the role of information is Hoek & Pauly 2006.

## 3. Analyzing Power

This section looks at games in which individuals or groups take their choices independently and concurrently, and, we stress once more, abstracting away from how the interaction evolves in time. It pays particular attention to the relation between players’ choices and preferences, mentioning the role of knowledge, and most importantly it deals with how to express solution concepts in a logical language.

The section first describes the general setting of cooperative games, then it considers the more restricted and possibly better-known class of strategic games.

### 3.1 Cooperative Games and Their Logic

The description of the game given in a relational structure of the
form \((\mathcal{N}, W, \succeq, E)\) is not enough to understand
which exact outcome *will be* chosen in the end. For that we
need a solution concept, i.e., a mapping that associates to a game a
set of outcomes of that game (Abdou & Keiding 1991).

A number of solution concepts have been introduced for coalitional
games (see for instance Osborne & Rubinstein 1994, and Apt 2009
(Other Internet Resources)). For the present purposes we are only
going to discuss what is possibly the best-known: the core. The core
is a collection of stable outcomes, i.e., outcomes for which no
coalition exists whose members are both able and willing to deviate
from it. It can be seen as the set of outcomes to which *there is
no effective opposition* (Abdou & Keiding 1991).

Formally, given a relational structure \(F=(\mathcal{N}, W, \succeq,
E)\), an outcome \(w\in W\) is said to be **stable** if
there is no coalition \(C\) and set of outcomes \(X\subseteq W\) such
that both of the following conditions are satisfied:

- \(X \in E(C)\)
- \(y \in X\) and \(i\in C\) implies that \(y \succ_i w\)

In words, an outcome is stable if there is no group of individuals that can achieve an alternative that they all strictly prefer.

The **core** is the collection of all stable
outcomes.

**Example 6:**

Consider the outcome 1M, which is the only outcome that Germany
reckons acceptable. Germany, as already observed, have an effectivity
function of \(E(\{\textrm{Germany}\})=\{W\}\) so, on their own, are
not able to turn their preference into an outcome. However, together
with other Countries, they are able to do so. Suppose their allies are
Belgium, France and The Netherlands. Is 1M then a *good*
outcome? If we look at the preferences of the other players in the
coalition, i.e., Belgium, France, The Netherlands, we observe the
following. Belgium had rather an outcome between 4M and 5M, France and
The Netherlands exactly 5M. These Countries could get together and
select 5M, which is an outcome that is acceptable to them. However the
effectivity function of \(\{\)Belgium, France, The Netherlands\(\}\)
is \(E(\{\)Belgium, France, The Netherlands\(\})=\{W\}\), which means
that the three Countries are not enough to pass the 5M bill. But the
coalition made by Belgium, France, Italy and The Netherlands would be.
Notice moreover that 5M is one of Italy’s preferred outcomes. 5M
is in fact the only stable outcome of the game: there is no coalition
that is together willing and capable of deviating from it.

Modal logic can be used to represent the core. Consider first the formula

\[p \rightarrow \bigvee_{C\subseteq N} [C]\left(\bigwedge_{i\in C}\Diamond^\succ_i p\right)\]
This says that if \(p\) is true then members of some coalition can
improve upon *some* \(p\) world, which does not seem the right
formula to express stability in logic. However we can prove the following results, which utilizes the
correspondence between the formula and a specific class of frames.

Let \(E\) be an (outcome monotonic) effectivity function and let \(\succeq_i\) a weak linear order. Then:

\[(F,V'), w \models p \rightarrow \bigvee_{C\subseteq N} [C]\left(\bigwedge_{i\in C}\Diamond^\succ_i p\right)\]holds at \(w\) for each \(V'\) if and only there exists a \(C\subseteq N\) and \(X \in E_w(C)\) such that, for all \(i\in C\), \(x\in X\) we have that \(x \succ_i w\).

So the formula holds at \(w\) for each valuation if and only if \(w\) does not belong to the core. Clearly, if the formula is false at an outcome and some valuation, then this means that the outcome does belong to the core.

Notice that, since effectivity functions are outcome monotonic, if we have that \(X \in E_w(C)\) and

\[X \subseteq \left(\bigwedge_{i\in C} \Diamond^\succ_i p\right)^{(F,V')},\]then

\[\left(\bigwedge_{i\in C} \Diamond^\succ_i p\right)^{(F,V')} \in E_w(C).\]Also notice that the result above allows for the case of

\[\emptyset=\left(\bigwedge_{i\in C}\Diamond^\succ_i p\right)^{M} \in E_w(C),\]which might be counterintuitive. Requiring \(E\) to have liveness takes care of this.

Notice also how we had to impose a universal quantification on the set
of valuations. Without this explicit quantification, the formula would
only hold for one specific model, which would not be an appropriate
solution. If instead we are only interested in knowing whether
*there exists* some outcome that is stable or, conversely,
whether the core is empty, it is sufficient to require the formula
above to be an axiom. This would amount to say that *no*
outcome is stable, i.e., that the core is empty.

**Proposition 10**
Let \(F\) be a frame. We have that

if and only if no outcome in \(F\) belongs to the core.

Again, liveness would take care of the trivial case in which

\[\left(\bigwedge_{i\in C}\Diamond^\succ_i p\right)^{(F,V)}=\emptyset.\]
An alternative approach is to identify each outcome with a name (or **nominal**) in the
language, i.e., to use a hybrid logic. Then we have the following.

**Proposition 11**
Let \(w_k\) an atomic proposition be true at outcome \(w_k\) and only at
outcome \(w_k\).

if and only if \(w_k\) does not belong to the core.

So depending on the properties we are interested in, different extensions of basic modal logic combined with different forms of validity (at a world vs model vs frame) are best-suited to express them.

### 3.2 Strategic Games and Their Logic

Normal form games, or strategic games, are a representation of what individuals, rather than coalitions, can achieve, and what their preferences are.

Formally, a strategic game form is a tuple

\[(N, W, \{\Sigma_i\}_{i\in N}, o)\]
where *N* is a finite set of players, \(W\) a set of outcomes,
\(\{\Sigma_i\}_{i\in N}\) a collection of strategies, one for each
player \(i\), \(o: \prod_{i\in N} \Sigma_i \to W\) an outcome
function, associating a tuple of strategies to an outcome.

A strategic game is a tuple \((S,\{\succeq_i\}_{i\in N})\), where \(S\) is a strategic game form and \(\{\succeq_i\}_{i\in N}\) a collection of preference relations, one for each player \(i\).

**Example 7:** If
we think of the Countries in our previous example as individual
players and their votes as individual strategies, we can model the
Treaty of Rome game as a strategic game, where each individual can
vote an amount of money to dedicate to border protection and
preferences are as above.

The outcome function will take care to associate to each individual player’s vote the final outcome of the collective decision, e.g., selecting an outcome voted by a set of Countries with voting weight of at least 12, or resulting in no decision if no consensus is reached.

For instance:

- France vote 0M
- Belgium vote 2M
- Italy vote 10M
- Germany vote 0M
- The Netherlands vote 0M
- Luxembourg vote 0M

This round results in no decision, because no outcome has collected voting weight of at least 12.

However, suppose that the second round is such that everyone but Belgium stick to their vote, and assume Belgium switches to voting 0M. Now 0M has an aggregate of 13, which means it is chosen as the final decision.

Looking at the unified treatment of our example, there seem to be relationship between normal form games and coalitional games. This relationship can be specified formally.

Let us first consider what a group of players can do in a normal form
game. To do so we define the **\(\alpha\)-effectivity
function**, a mathematical description of coalitional
strategies in a game in terms of the sets outcomes that they can
force.

**Definition 12**
[\(\alpha\)-effectivity function] Let \(S\) be a strategic
game. We define the \(\alpha\) effectivity function of \(S\),
\(E^{\alpha}_S(C)\):

\(E^{\alpha}_S(C)= \{X\ \mid\) there exists \(\sigma_C\) such that for all \(\sigma'_{\overline{C}}\) we have that \(o(\sigma_C,\sigma'_{\overline{C}})\in X \}\)

Intuitively the \(\alpha\)-effectivity function of \(S\) collects, for every group of players, the set of outcomes that they can achieve by fixing a strategy of theirs, no matter how their opponents play.

**Proposition 13** (Goranko et al. 2013)

The \(\alpha\)-effectivity function of a strategic game is truly playable.

The following result shows the relationship between strategies and effectivity functions.

**Theorem 14** (Goranko et al. 2013)

An effectivity function is truly playable if and only if it is the \(\alpha\)-effectivity function of some strategic game.

This is a generalization of the result in Peleg 1998 for finite games, starting from models of strategic games first defined in Pauly 2001. In a nutshell what these results imply is the following.

**Proposition 15**
Let \(F\) a relational game structure. Then \(F\) is a strategic game
if and only if the following formulas are valid in \(F\) for disjoint
\(C,C^{\prime}\):

- \(\varphi \to \psi \models_F [C]\varphi \to [C]\psi\)
- \(\models_F [C] \top\)
- \(\models_F \neg [C] \bot\)
- \(\models_F \neg [\emptyset] \varphi \to [N]\varphi\)
- \(\models_F [C^{\prime}] \varphi \wedge [C]\psi \to [C^{\prime} \cup C](\varphi \wedge \psi)\)

In the same way we did for cooperative games, we can ask ourselves whether an outcome is stable, or rational, in a strategic situation.

**Nash equilibrium and definability** The main solution
concept to analyze strategic games is Nash equilibrium. Informally a
Nash equilibrium is a collection of strategies, one per player, such
that no player is interested to change his or her strategy, given the
others stick to theirs. Formally, a strategy profile \(\sigma\) is a
(pure strategy) **Nash equilibrium** if for all players
\(i\in N\) and for all \(\sigma'_i\in \Sigma_i\) we have that

**Example 8:**
Consider the following vote

- France vote 5M
- Belgium vote 5M
- Italy vote 10M
- Germany vote 1M
- The Netherlands vote 5M
- Luxembourg vote 5M

In this game there is no consensus on any budget. The situation might look like a deadlock, as everyone has voted according to their preference. However the outcome is disagreement, which no player prefers to any agreement. The only way that players can converge to an agreement is that Italy change their vote to 5M. If this happens 5M is achieved as an outcome.

Notice that the modified game, in which Italy vote 5M is a Nash equilibrium.

Consider now a modification of the game above, in which Italy and The Netherlands vote 10M, while the others stick to their vote. Surprisingly, despite the disagreement, this is Nash equilibrium, because no player is simultaneously able to get to some agreement, although being willing to do so.

How to express Nash equilibria in logic? Recall how the formula

\[p\to \bigvee_{C\subseteq N} [C]\left(\bigwedge_{i\in C}\Diamond^\succ_i p\right)\]
holds at a frame \(F\) if and only if the core is empty, and a hybrid
logic extension can tell us whether a specific outcome belongs to the
core. If \(F\) is based on a truly playable effectivity function we
already have a normal form game version of the core: an outcome such
that no coalition is together able and willing to deviate from,
*not taking into account* what the others do. However Nash
Equilibrium fixes a profile of strategies, such that no player is able
and willing to deviate from there. In other words it requires the
notion of best response for a player with respect to a given
profile.

Formalisms such as Coalition Logic are too weak to express Nash
equilibria. However, they can express the fact that certain
effectivity functions allow for the possibility of a Nash equilibrium.
This is what in Hansen & Pauly 2002 is called Nash-consistent
Coalition Logic. Nash Equilibrium is in fact not definable in basic
modal logic (Benthem et al. 2011), but it can be done with a modality
that *intersects* both the preference and the choice relations
(Benthem et al. 2011).

\((F,V),w\models \langle \approx_i \cap \succ_i \rangle \varphi\) if and only if \(w(\approx_i \cap \succ_i)w'\) implies that \(w'\models \varphi \)

Then the best response for \(i\) is defined as \( \langle \approx_i \cap \succ_i \rangle \top\), as there is no alternative that is at the same time achievable and preferable to \(i\). Alternatively a hybrid logic that mentions strategy profiles in the language can provide a solution, similarly to the case of the core.

#### 3.2.1 Non-monotonic Action Logics

Some logics exploit a more compact representation of those relational structures that correspond to strategic games.

Rather than using effectivity functions, each player \(i\) is
associated with an equivalence relation \(\approx_i \subseteq W\times
W\), whose induced partition represent the choices he or she can
perform. These equivalence relations describe the exact set of choices
that a group of players can perform and the originating models are
referred to as *consequentialist* in the literature (see for
instance Belnap, Perloff, & Ming 2001).

Now define an effectivity function \(E^{*}\) for which it holds that

\[E^{*}(i)= \{[x] \mid x' \in [x] \mbox{ whenever } x \approx_i x' \}^{+}\]
Intuitively \(E^{*}(i)\) collects what *exactly* the
individuals can achieve and all their supersets.

\(E^{*}\) is called **consequentialist** if holds
that:

- \(E^{*}(C)= \{\bigcap_{i\in C} X_i \mid \mbox{for some } X_i \in E^{*}(i)\}\)
- \(\emptyset\not\in E^{*}(C)\) for each \(C\neq N\)
- \(E^{*}(N) = \{\{x\} \mid x \in W\}^{+}\)

Notice that \(E^*\) is a truly playable effectivity function.

The last property is well-foundedness, as in the case of arbitrary effectivity functions. This is not a property that is assumed in all variants, e.g., the choice structures in Kooi & Tamminga 2008 and its temporal variant STIT (Belnap et al. 2001) do not. However, as observed in Turrini 2012 and Tamminga 2013, well-founded consequentialist models correspond to strategic games and the effectivity function \(E\) can be effectively simulated by the equivalence relation \(\approx_i\) for each player. Intuitively \(E^{*}(i)\) is the set of sets of outcomes that \(i\) can choose without being able to refine further.

To reason about consequentialist models, we use so-called consequentialist logics, i.e., propositional logic extended with modalities of the form \([C]\varphi\), interpreted as follows:

\(M,w \models [C]\varphi\) if and only if \(M,w'\models \varphi\) for all \(w'\) such that \(w (\bigcap_{i \in C} \approx_i)w'\)

Consequentialist logics have been developed to reason about action and consequence, and have interesting applications in deontic logic, such as Kooi & Tamminga 2008; Tamminga 2013; Turrini 2012. They are moreover the basis of temporal logics of strategy such as STIT and strategic STIT, discussed later. A special case are the logics of propositional control (Hoek & Wooldridge 2005; Troquard, Hoek, & Wooldridge 2009).

#### 3.2.2 Logic-Based Games

In many situations agents have control over certain propositional
variables (Hoek & Wooldridge 2005), for instance they can be
responsible for traffic flow or they can veto a certain issue.
Variables can also be shared (Gerbrandy 2006), an example being
voting, where players share control over a variable whose realization
is determined by a certain aggregation function, e.g., majority
(Troquard, Hoek, & Wooldridge 2011). These logics of
*propositional control* specify what propositions agents have
in their effectivity function. For instance, if agent \(i\) controls
\(p\), then both \(p^{M}\) and \(\neg p^{M}\) are in his or her
effectivity function. In a way these models are very special types of
effectivity function, and what agents control can be seen as a choice,
or a strategy, available to them.

Logics for propositional control have modalities of the type \([[i]]\varphi\), meaning that player \(i\) has a “control” strategy to see to it that, no matter how the other agents choose their control strategies, then \(\varphi\) holds in the end. But they also have modalities of the type \([[C]]\varphi\), meaning that players in \(C\) have a joint control strategy ensuring \(\varphi\) in the end. A strategy profile is thus equivalent to a valuation function, which assigns a truth value of every proposition available. In turn, a strategy of a player \(i\) can thus be seen as a partial valuation function, that assigns a truth value only to the propositions controlled by \(i\).

Slightly abusing notation, we say that a valuation \(V\) satisfies a formula \(\varphi\), denoted \(V \models \varphi\), whenever it makes \(\varphi\) true under the current assignment of propositions. In other words, propositional control games are played in one single world, and the individual assignments determine what propositions are true are that world. Denoting \(\mathcal{V}\) the set of all valuations and \(\mathcal{V}_i\) to the partial ones under the control of \(i\) we have the following.

\((F,V) \models [[C]]\varphi\) if and only if for all \(i \in C\), there exists \(V'_i \in \mathcal{V}_i\) such that, for all \(k \in \overline{C}, V'_{k}\in \mathcal{V}_k\), we have that \((F,V')\models \varphi\)

So when \([[C]]\varphi\) holds, coalition \(C\) can play a control strategy in such a way that no matter what the control strategy is that their opponents play, the resulting outcome satisfies \(\varphi\).

Logics for propositional control can be extended to goal-based formalisms, the so called Boolean games (Harrenstein, van der Hoek, Meyer, & Witteveen 2001): propositions are partitioned among the players, with each player controlling the set of propositions he or she is assigned to. On top of that each player is also assigned a formula of propositional logic which is meant to be his or her goal and whose realization might not only depend upon the choices he or she is able to make.

Boolean games have been extensively studied in the field of multi-agent systems, as simple and compact models to represent strategic interaction in a logic-based setting (Dunne & Hoek 2004; Dunne & Wooldridge 2012; Dunne, Hoek, Kraus, & Wooldridge 2008).

In their most general variants they are an extension of logics with propositional control, where each agent is assigned a goal formula. The goal formula is a satisfiable formula of the language and the important feature is that the goal of each agent does not need to be under his or her control.

For instance, agent \(i\) may be assigned the control of proposition \(p\) only, but might have the goal that \(p \leftrightarrow q\). So whether \(i\)’s goal is satisfied depends not only on \(i\) setting proposition \(p\) to be true, but also some other agent, say \(j\), setting proposition \(q\) to be true. Agent \(j\), on the other hand, might or might not be interested in having \(q\) set to true. For instance he or she may want proposition \(r\) to be true, and therefore being indifferent to whether \(q\) or \(\overline{q}\) is realized in the end. Or might even have the goal that \(\overline{q}\).

In Boolean games some objectives can be realized all together, for instance agents might all want \(p \vee \neg q\) to be true, or it might be the case that certain valuations do not realize the objectives of all agents, but no unhappy agent is able to improve his or her own situation by changing the assignment to the propositional variables he or she controls. This situation is a very simple form of Nash equilibrium that can be expressed in Boolean games.

So, for \(\gamma_i\) being the objective of player \(i\) and \(v_i\) a partial valuation that is under control of player \(i\), we say that valuation \(v\) is a Nash equilibrium if we have that for each \(i\) and each \(v'_i\).

\[(v_i,v_{-i}) \not\models\gamma_i \mbox{ implies that } (v'_i,v_{-i}) \not\models\gamma_i\]So if \(v\) does not satisfy \(i\)’s goal, there is nothing \(i\) can do to satisfy it.

The analysis of Nash equilibria in Boolean game shows a close correspondence between these games and propositional logic: using a reduction to the satisfiability problem of propositional logic formulas, the problem of checking whether an outcome \(v\) is a Nash equilibrium of a Boolean game is co-NP complete (Wooldridge, Endriss, Kraus, & Lang 2013).

## 4. Conclusions: On the Right Level of Analysis

Recall the very first example, in which the set of outcomes of a voting game could be described only considering the overall outcome of the vote or by explicitly describing what each of the Countries had voted.

Often times, when describing mathematical structures by succinct languages we are confronted with the question of which one is the most suitable language. Some are able to express preferences, knowledge and coalitional ability all together, some others only about two of them, some others about only one. Finally some languages might only be able to express what individuals, and not coalitions, can achieve.

Again, there is no right answer to this question. It all depends on what the fundamental characteristics are that one is trying to model. To express Nash equilibria in a coordination game, there is no need for a temporal logic-based formalism. On the contrary, if one wants to express backwards induction, then a language that does not make the sequential structure of the decision problem explicit is probably not the right one.

Going back to our example, some Countries might have preferences over how other Countries vote, and this might affect their decision-making, changing the overall equilibrium points of the game. If this is the case then the richer language matters. Otherwise, if we can safely rule out this possibility, the more succinct language seems to be the appropriate choice.

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## Other Internet Resources

- Apt, Krzysztof, 2009, “Cooperative Games”, Course Notes, Centrum Wiskunde & Informatica, Amsterdam.
- Logic in Action

### Acknowledgments

The author wishes to thank the anonymous reviewers and Valentin Goranko for the very constructive comments on earlier versions of the manuscript.