# Explanation in Mathematics

*First published Sun Apr 6, 2008; substantive revision Fri Mar 16, 2018*

The philosophical analysis of mathematical explanations concerns itself with two different, although connected, areas of investigation. The first area addresses the problem of whether mathematics can play an explanatory role in the natural and social sciences. The second deals with the problem of whether mathematical explanations occur within mathematics itself. Accordingly, this entry surveys the contributions to both areas, it shows their relevance to the history of philosophy, mathematics, and science, it articulates their connection, and points to the philosophical pay-offs to be expected by deepening our understanding of the topic.

- 1. Mathematical explanations in the natural sciences
- 2. The explanatory role of mathematics in science: some historical remarks
- 3. Philosophical relevance of mathematical explanations in science
- 4. Mathematical explanations within mathematics
- 5. Mathematical explanations: some historical remarks
- 6. Two models for mathematical explanation: Steiner and Kitcher
- 7. Recent developments
- 8. Connections to other debates
- 9. Conclusion
- Bibliography
- Academic Tools
- Other Internet Resources
- Related Entries

## 1. Mathematical explanations in the natural sciences

Mathematics plays a central role in our scientific picture of the world. How the connection between mathematics and the world is to be accounted for remains one of the most challenging problems in philosophy of science, philosophy of mathematics, and general philosophy. A very important aspect of this problem is that of accounting for the explanatory role mathematics seems to play in the account of physical phenomena.

Consider the following example from evolutionary biology introduced in Baker 2005 and discussed extensively in the philosophical literature. It has to do with the life-cycle of the so-called ‘periodical’ cicada. It turns out that three species of such cicadas:

…share the same unusual life-cycle. In each species the nymphal stage remains in the soil for a lengthy period, then the adult cicada emerges after 13 years or 17 years depending on the geographical area. Even more strikingly, this emergence is synchronized among the members of a cicada species in any given area. The adults all emerge within the same few days, they mate, die a few weeks later and then the cycle repeats itself.” (2005, 229)

Several questions have been raised about this specific type of life cycle but one of them is why such periods are prime. One explanation appeals to the biological claim that cicadas that minimize intersection with other cicadas’ and predators’ life cycles have an evolutionary advantage over those that do not. The mathematical component of the explanation complements the biological claim by pointing out that prime periods minimize intersection.

When we move to physics, it becomes even more difficult—given
the highly mathematized nature of the subject—to distinguish
between the mathematical and the physical components of an
explanation. Consider the following example. Mark the faces of a
tennis racket with
*R* (for rough) and *S* (for smooth). Hold the tennis
racket horizontally by its handle with face *S* facing
up. Let *y* be the intermediate principal axis. This is the
vertical axis perpendicular to the handle and passing through the
center of mass of the racquet. Toss the racket attempting to make it
rotate about the *y* axis. Catch the racket by its handle after
one full rotation. The surprising observation is that the
*R* face will almost always be up (one would expect *S*
to be up). In other words, the racket makes a half twist about its
handle. An explanation of this phenomenon was given in Ashbaugh,
Chicone, & Cushman 1991. They say: “In this paper we
explain the twist by analyzing the [differential] equations of motion
of the tennis racket in space…Our treatment of the twist is
divided into two parts. In the first part we prove two theorems which
show that the handle moves nearly in a plane and rotates nearly
uniformly…In the second part, we discuss how the twist and
rotation of the handle are related” (Ashbaugh & others 1991,
68). There is no question that we are explaining a physical regularity
but mathematics enters here both in the modeling of the phenomenon and
in the explanatory account by means of the classical dynamics of a
rotating tennis racket.

Another simple example, in which a geometrical fact seems to do much of the explaining, has been offered by Peter Lipton:

There also appear to be physical explanations that are non-causal. Suppose that a bunch of sticks are thrown into the air with a lot of spin so that they twirl and tumble as they fall. We freeze the scene as the sticks are in free fall and find that appreciably more of them are near the horizontal than near the vertical orientation. Why is this? The reason is that there are more ways for a stick to be the horizontal than near the vertical. To see this, consider a single stick with a fixed midpoint position. There are many ways this stick could be horizontal (spin it around in the horizontal plane), but only two ways it could be vertical (up or down). This asymmetry remains for positions near horizontal and vertical, as you can see if you think about the full shell traced out by the stick as it takes all possible orientations. This is a beautiful explanation for the physical distribution of the sticks, but what is doing the explaining are broadly geometrical facts that cannot be causes. (Lipton 2004, 9–10)

While not everyone agrees as to the role of mathematics in the above explanations, or whether they are explanations, it is clear that one of the reasons why philosophers are especially interested in such explanations is that they appear to be counterexamples to the claim that all explanations in the natural sciences must be causal. The dominant accounts of scientific explanation (see Salmon 1984, Cartwright 1989, Woodward 2003, Strevens 2008, and Woodward 2014 for an overview) in the natural sciences have been causal accounts: to provide an explanation of a scientific fact is to provide its cause or the mechanism yielding the fact (on mechanistic explanations see Woodward 2013, Andersen 2014, and Craver and Tabery 2016). The last two decades has witnessed major contributions in the study of non-causal explanations in the sciences (for a recent volume devoted to the issue see Reutlinger & Saatsi 2018). And since many of the non-causal explanations that have been discussed in the literature are mathematical explanations, this area of philosophy of science is fueled by concerns related to the nature of scientific explanation.

In addition to the examples given above and several others to be mentioned below, other cases of explanation that have been extensively discussed include the FitzGerald-Lorentz contraction of bodies in special relativity (Colyvan 2001, 2002), the impossibility of crossing all the Königsberg bridges passing only once on any single bridge (Pincock 2007), the hexagonal shape of honeycomb cells (Lyon and Colyvan 2008), Plateau’s soap films (Lyon 2012, Pincock 2015a), and the location of the Kirkwood gaps (Colyvan 2010).

Importantly related is the issue of mathematical modeling and of whether an explanatory modeling of a scientific phenomenon needs to provide a veridical representation of the salient causes (or of a causal mechanism) in the target phenomenon. Many philosophers who defend the causal theory of explanation also defend a (veridical) causal conception of modeling but many challenges have been raised against the latter conception. For instance, endorsing the conclusions of Batterman’s work (see section 3) Rice claims:

In other words, sometime a model is a better explanation in virtue of, rather than in spite of, its being highly idealized and providing little (if any) accurate information about causes. (Rice 2015, 590)

The topic interacts also with the problem of characterizing the role of idealization in science. As we shall see, alleged counterexamples to the causal theory of explanation as well as to the causal theory of modeling come from areas as diverse as mathematics, physics, biology, and economics.

Having established that mathematics seems to play an important role in giving explanations in the natural sciences, we now move to a few historical remarks on how this problem has emerged in the history of philosophy and science.

## 2. The explanatory role of mathematics in science: some historical remarks

Does mathematics help explain the physical world or does it actually hinder a grasp of the physical mechanisms that explain the how and why of natural phenomena? It is not possible here to treat this topic in its full complexity but a few remarks will help the reader appreciate the historical importance of the question.

Aristotle describes his ideal of scientific knowledge in “Posterior Analytics” in terms of, among other things, knowledge of the cause:

We suppose ourselves to possess unqualified scientific knowledge of a thing, as opposed to knowing it in the accidental way in which the sophist knows, when we think that we know the cause on which the fact depends as the cause of the fact and of no other, and further, that the fact could not be other than it is. (BWA, 111, Post. An. I.1, 71b 5–10)

The causes [aitia] in question are the four Aristotelian causes: formal, material, efficient, and final. Nowadays, translators and commentators of Aristotle prefer to translate aitia as ‘explanation’, so that the theory of the four causes becomes an account of four types of explanations. For instance here is Barnes’ translation of the passage quoted earlier: “We think we understand a thing simpliciter (and not in the sophistic fashion accidentally) whenever we think we are aware both that the explanation because of which the object is is its explanation, and that it is not possible for this to be otherwise.” (Aristotle CWA, 115, Post. An. I.1, 71b 5–10)

But how do we obtain scientific knowledge? Scientific knowledge is obtained through demonstration. However, not all logically cogent proofs provide us with the kind of demonstration that yields scientific knowledge. In a scientific demonstration “the premisses must be true, primary, immediate, better known and prior to the conclusion, which is further related to them as effect to causes.” (BWA, 112, Post. An. I.1, 71b 20–25) In Barnes’ translation: “If, then, understanding is as we posited, it is necessary for demonstrative understanding in particular to depend on things which are true and primitive and immediate and more familiar than and prior to and explanatory of the conclusion” (Aristotle CWA, 115, Post. An. I.1, 71b 20–25).

Accordingly, in “Posterior Analytics” I.13, Aristotle distinguished between demonstrations “of the fact” and demonstrations “of the reasoned fact”. Although both are logically cogent only the latter mirror the causal structure of the phenomena under investigation, and thus provide us with knowledge. We can call them, respectively, “non-explanatory” and “explanatory” demonstrations.

In Aristotle’s system, physics was not mathematized although causal reasonings were proper to it. However, Aristotle also discussed extensively the so-called mixed sciences, such as optics, harmonics, and mechanics, characterizing them as “the more physical of the mathematical sciences”. There is a relation of subordination between these mixed sciences and areas of pure mathematics. For instance, harmonics is subordinated to arithmetic and optics to geometry. Aristotle is in no doubt that there are mathematical explanations of physical phenomena:

For here it is for the empirical scientist to know the fact and for the mathematical to know the reason why; for the latter have the demonstrations of the explanations, and often they do not know the fact, just as those who consider the universal often do not know some of the particulars through lack of observation. (Aristotle CWA, vol. I, 128, Post. An. I.13, 79a1–79a7)

However, the topic of whether mathematics could give explanations of natural phenomena was one on which there was disagreement. As the domains to which mathematics could be applied grew, so also did the resistance to it. One source of tension consisted in trying to reconcile the Aristotelian conception of pure mathematics, as abstracting from matter and motion, with the fact that both physics (natural philosophy) and the mixed sciences are all conversant about natural phenomena and thus dependent on matter and motion. For instance, an important debate in the Renaissance, known as the Quaestio de Certitudine Mathematicarum, focused in large part on whether mathematics could play the explanatory role assigned to it by Aristotle. Some argued that lacking causality, mathematics could not be the ‘explanatory’ link in the explanation of natural phenomena (see also section 5).

By the time we reach the seventeenth century and the Newtonian revolution in physics, the problem reappears in the context of a change of criteria of explanation and intelligibility. This has been beautifully described in an article by Y. Gingras (2001). Gingras argues that “the use of mathematics in dynamics (as distinct from its use in kinematics) had the effect of transforming the very meaning of the term ‘explanation’ as it was used by philosophers in the seventeenth century” (385). What Gingras describes, among other things, is how the mathematical treatment of force espoused by Newton and his followers—a treatment that ignored the mechanisms that could explain why and how this force operated—became an accepted standard for explanation during the eighteenth century. After referring to the seventeenth and eighteenth centuries’ discussions on the mechanical explanation of gravity, he remarks:

This episode shows that the evaluation criteria for what was to count as an acceptable ‘explanation’ (of gravitation in this case) were shifting towards mathematics and away from mechanical explanations. Confronted with a mathematical formulation of a phenomenon for which there was no mechanical explanation, more and more actors chose the former even at the price of not finding the latter. This was something new. For the whole of the seventeenth century and most of the eighteenth, to ‘explain’ a physical phenomenon meant to give a physical mechanism involved in its production….The publication of Newton’sPrincipiamarks the beginning of this shift where mathematical explanations came to be preferred to mechanical explanations when the latter did not conform to calculations. (Gingras 2001, 398)

Among those who resisted this confusion between “physical
explanations” and “mathematical explanations” was
the Jesuit Louis Castel. In “Vrai système de physique
générale de M. Isaac Newton” (Paris, 1734), he
discussed *Principia*’s proposition XIII of Book III (on Kepler’s law of
areas). He granted that the proposition connected mathematically the
inverse square law to the ellipticity of the course of the
planets. However, he objected that “the one is not the cause,
the reason of the other” (Castel 1734, 97) and that Newton had
not provided any physical explanation, only a mathematical one. Indeed
“physical reasons are necessary reasons of entailment, of
linkages, of mechanism. In Newton, there is none of this
kind.” (Castel 1734, 121)

It would be interesting to pursue these questions into the nineteenth and the twentieth centuries but that is obviously not something that can be done here (see however Dorato 2017 for a wide-ranging claim concerning “explanatory switches” at crucial junctions in the history of physics). Rather, the aim of the above was to prepare the ground for showing how in contemporary discussions in philosophy of science, to which we now turn, we are still confronted with such issues.

## 3. Philosophical relevance of mathematical explanations in science

There are two major areas in which the discussion of whether mathematics can play an explanatory role in science makes itself felt. The first concerns issues of modeling and idealization in science and more generally, as pointed out in section 1, the nature of scientific explanation. The second, concerns the nominalism-platonism debate. By and large the former area is a major concern to philosophers of science. The latter is the preoccupation of those philosophers of mathematics primarily concerned with issues of existence of mathematical entities. There are however non-trivial intersections between the two areas. These are surveyed in the next two sub-sections.

### 3.1 Mathematics, modeling and idealization

A good starting point here is Morrison’s book “Unifying Scientific Theories” (2000). One of the major theses of the book is that unification and explanation often pull in different directions and come apart (contrary to what is claimed by unification theories of explanation). One of the examples discussed in her introduction reminds us of Castel’s objections:

Another example is the unification of terrestrial and celestial phenomena in Newton’sPrincipia. Although influenced by Cartesian machanics, one of the most striking features of thePrincipiais its move away from explanations of planetary motions in terms of mechanical causes. Instead, the mathematical form of force is highlighted; the planetary ellipses discovered by Kepler are “explained” in terms of a mathematical description of the force that produces those motions. Of course, the inverse-square law of gravitational attraction explains why the planets move in the way they do, but there is no explanation of how this gravitational force acts on bodies (how it is transported), nor is there any account of its causal properties. (Morrison 2000, 4)

Using several case studies (Maxwell’s electromagnetism, the electroweak unification, etc.), Morrison argues that the mathematical structures involved in the unification “often supply little or no theoretical explanation of the physical dynamics of the unified theory” (Morrison 2000, 4). In short, the mathematical formalism facilitates unification but does not help us explain the how and why of physical phenomena.

By contrast, Batterman in “The Devil in the Details” (2002), analyzes a wide class of explanations—asymptotic explanations—which heavily rely on mathematics. “Asymptotic reasoning—the taking of limits as a means to simplify, and the study of the nature of these limits—constitutes the main method of idealization in the mathematician’s tool box” (Batterman 2002, 132). These methods proceed by ignoring many details, even of a causal nature, about the phenomenon being analyzed (one speaks of minimal models in this connection). But despite this fact, nay, in virtue of it, one arrives at correct explanations of the phenomena. In fact, the reason why “asymptotic analyses so often provide physical insight is that they illuminate structurally stable aspects of the phenomenon and its governing equations.” (Batterman 2002, 59).

Batterman offers examples from, among other areas, statistical mechanics, thermodynamics, optics, hydrodynamics, and quantum mechanics. In addition to his book, he developed his position in several articles (2005, 2009, 2010a, 2010b, 2011). See also Pincock 2011b for a detailed working out of the mathematical explanation of the rainbow that extends this approach.

Reactions to Batterman’s position include Redhead 2004, Belot 2005, Norton 2012, Pincock 2011a and 2012, Strevens 2008, Wayne 2011, 2012, and Bueno and French 2012. Objections range from claiming that asymptotic idealization are not needed to explain the target phenomenon to claiming that the “emergent qualitative features” that Batterman claims are yielded by asymptotic idealizations are not even genuine targets of explanation (this second aspect is connected to more general debates on emergence in physics). Strevens 2017 articulates, contra Norton 2012, what he takes to be the novel features of Batterman’s asymptotic (infinitary) idealizations that distinguish them from other non-infinitary idealizations (frictionless planes and ideal gases). He does so by appealing to cases from population genetics where one postulates “infinite populations”.

We thus see that the problem of the explanatory role of mathematics in science is intimately related to problems of modeling and idealization in science (see Morrison 2015). In turn, understanding how modeling and idealization work is an integral part of addressing the question of how mathematics hooks on to reality, i.e. an account of the applicability of mathematics to reality (see Shapiro 2000, 35 and 217). It would of course be impossible here to describe the major accounts of mathematical applications on offer. However, the discussion on mathematical explanation in the empirical sciences has fruitfully interacted with some of the proposals on offer. One such proposal is the mapping account of mathematical applications offered by Pincock (2007, 2011c, 2012). The mapping account emphasizes the centrality of the existence of a mapping between the mathematical structures and the empirical reality that is the target of the scientific modeling. Critics have claimed that while there are aspects of the applications of mathematics that are correctly captured by the mapping account, there are also aspects related to mathematical idealization and explanation that it does not manage to capture. This led to the inferential conception of applications of mathematics defended by Bueno and Colyvan 2011 (which preserves some of the mapping account defended by Pincock) and to refinements of Batterman’s own position (see, for instance, Batterman 2010a). Pincock 2011a and 2012 replies to some of the criticisms and argues that his account can be extended to handle mathematical idealizations and explanations. More criticisms are raised in Rizza 2013 who argues that examples from social choice theory cannot be handled by mapping accounts such as those defended by Pincock and Bueno and Colyvan.

Pincock’s position is classified in Batterman and Rice 2014 as sharing with many others (including those based on causal theories of explanation and those based on mechanistic explanations cited in section 1) a representational bias. Batterman and Rice offer instead examples of explanations in which models can be explanatory even when there are no “common features” (a mirroring relation of sorts) between the model and the phenomena being explained. They claim that one such case is the case of lattice gas automaton models of fluid dynamics: these minimal models are said to account for the universal behavior of some fluids while also failing to represent any of the relevant microphysics of actual fluids. Batterman and Rice note that these explanations can be understood using renormalization group techniques. These minimal models are also extensively used in biology (Fisher’s model of one-to-one sex ratios). Batterman and Rice conclude:

We contend that what accounts for the explanatory power of many of these caricature models is not that they accurately mirror, map, track, or otherwise represent real systems. Instead, these minimal models are explanatory because there is a detailed story about why the myriad details that distinguish a class of systems are irrelevant to their large-scale behavior. (Batterman and Rice 2014, 373)

One should point out that the terminology of minimal model is also used in a different sense in the literature, for instance in Weisberg 2007 and Strevens 2008; in this second use, minimal models provide essential causal details. Chirimuuta 2014 distinguishes B-minimal models (of the Batterman type) and A-minimal models (of the Weisberg-Strevens type). Chirimuuta herself defines a class of minimal models (I-minimal models) that “figure prominently in explanations of why a particular neural system exhibits a particular empirically observed behaviour, by referring to its computational function.” (2014, p. 144)

Rice 2015 (see also 2012) focuses on optimality models, which are widely used in physics, biology and economics. He argues that these models explain without tracking any genuine causal structure in the target phenomenon. Such models give rise to “optimization explanations”. Baron 2014 considers a case of mathematical explanation in science concerning search patterns of fully-aquatic marine predators and argues that mathematical explanations in science are rather common on account of the widespread use of optimality models of statistical nature (such as Lévy walks displayed in the search patterns mentioned above). Baron 2016b also discusses the example in connection to the role idealizations play in such explanations (see also Potochnik 2007).

While Batterman and Rice claim that explanations that depend on renormalization group techniques are not causal, Reutlinger 2014 insists that causal factors are still present. But Reutlinger also admits that non-causal factors are crucial due to the role of mathematical operations. He thus links these cases to Lange’s class of distinctively mathematical explanations (Lange 2013c, see below). For more on renormalization techniques and mathematical explanation see Batterman 2010b, Reutlinger 2014, 2017a and 2017b, Povich 2016, and Morrison 2018.

Minimal models are also discussed in Chirimuuta 2014, Lange 2015a, and Povich 2016. Lange raises several objections to Batterman and Rice’s account of how minimal models work and to why the “common features” approach fails to account for such explanations. Povich defends a “common features” approach. Pincock and Batterman are criticized in Reutlinger and Andersen 2016 on account of relying on the assumption that abstract explanations, defined as those that leave out most of the microphysical causal details of the target phenomenon to be explained, have to be non-causal. They claim, by contrast, that a) abstract explanations often do identify causes and b) that they often are causally explanatory. Andersen 2106, which aims to provide a friendly amendment to Lange 2013c, sees complementarity and not opposition between causal and mathematical explanations.

Other examples of non-causal explanations include dimensional explanations (Lange 2009, Pexton 2014), graph-theoretic explanations of empirical facts (Pincock 2007, 2012, Lange 2013c), kinematic explanations in physics (Saatsi 2018), explanations given in terms of symmetry principles and conservation laws (Lange 2007, 2013a, 2017; French and Saatsi 2018); multi-level explanations in biology (Clarke 2016); “efficient coding” explanations in computational neuro-science (Chirimuuta 2014, 2017, 2018).

As it will be obvious from the previous discussion, the literature on mathematical explanations in the sciences has now grown too large to be described in detail. But here are some further foci of discussion that should be mentioned, without any attempt at completeness.

As we have seen, much attention has been devoted recently to structural explanations in physics, namely explanations of specific phenomena given in terms of mathematical properties of the systems in which they occur. Bokulich 2011, generalizing notions of structural explanation developed in Railton 1980, Hughes 1989, and Clifton 1998 (Other Internet Resources), speaks of structural model explanation, “that is, one in which the explanandum can be seen as a consequence of the structure of the theory or theories employed in the model (in this case a particular blending of classical and quantum mechanics), which limits what sorts of objects, properties, states or behaviors are admissible within the framework of that theory” (p. 40).

Dorato and Felline 2010b argue that contraction of rods and dilation of clocks can be structurally explained by properties of Minkowski space-time (but see also Smart 1990, Colyvan 2001 and 2002 and Lange 2013a) and Dorato and Felline 2010a claim that quantum entanglement is structurally explained by the non-commutativity of certain operators and the uncertainty principle by the properties of the limits of Fourier transforms (see also Felline 2018 and Dorato 2017).

In biology and medicine such structural explanations are found in terms of “topological explanations”. Much of the interest in this area has been the analysis of whether, and if so how, such explanations differ from mechanistic explanations (see Huneman 2010, Brigandt 2013, Woodward 2013, Jones 2014, Kostic 2016, Huneman 2018, Darrason 2018 for case studies and further references). A characteristic of such explanations is that one makes use of graph-theoretic or topological properties of a system to explain properties of the system such as stability under perturbations.

A variety of responses (reductionism to causal accounts, pluralism, monism) can be developed in reaction to the presence of non-causal scientific explanations (see Reutlinger 2017c for a discussion of the options). For instance, much work has been devoted to incorporating non-causal explanations into counterfactual theories of explanation (see Baron, Colyvan, and Ripley 2017; Bokulich 2008; Kistler 2013; Saatsi and Pexton 2013; Pexton 2014; Pincock 2015a; Rice 2015; Reutlinger 2016, 2018; Saatsi 2018; Jansson and Saatsi 2017; French and Saatsi 2018; Woodward 2018).

A pressing issue has become that of identifying what is distinctively mathematical in mathematical explanations of scientific facts. Lange (2013c, 2017, 2018) has recently put forward a modal theory of explanation, according to which mathematical explanations of scientific facts act as constraints which have modal necessity stronger than causal necessity. As he puts it in Lange 2013c: “A distinctively mathematical explanation works by showing the explanandum to be more necessary (given the physical arrangement in question) than ordinary causal laws could render it. Distinctively mathematical explanations thus supply a kind of understanding that causal explanations cannot.” He calls many of these explanations “explanations by constraint” and distinguishes them from causal explanations and from “really statistical” explanations (for instance, but not exclusively, explanations by regression toward the mean; for more on statistical explanations see Lange 2013b). Craver and Povich 2017 argue that Lange’s theory of explanation by constraint (and even his account of “really statistical” explanations) is flawed, for it fails to account for the directionality of the explanatory relation in distinctively mathematical explanations. Pincock 2015a proposes to account for mathematical explanations in science by appealing to a notion of “abstract explanation” considered as one which involves “an appeal to a more abstract entity than the state of affairs being explained.” Pincock defends an ontic account of explanation based on dependence relations that are different from causal relations. Abstract explanations classify systems, as opposed to emphasizing the modal character of the system’s properties (see also Pincock 2018). Baron 2017 revamps the deductive-nomological model to account for mathematical explanations of scientific facts by using an informational account of relevance logic to capture the dependence relation between mathematical facts and physics facts.

### 3.2 Indispensability arguments

Whereas the issues treated in section 3.1 affect mainly the methodology of science, a different set of issues has emerged in connection to the nominalism-platonism debate in philosophy of mathematics. Colyvan 2010 (and the earlier Colyvan 2006) contrasts hard road and easy road nominalism. While the hard road nominalist offers non-mathematical versions of our best scientific theories, the easy road nominalist simply retains the original, mathematical versions of the theories, and qualifies our acceptance of them so as to exclude a commitment to abstract entities. Colyvan argues that easy road nominalists such as Azzouni, Melia and Yablo are unable to account for the explanatory role of mathematics in science, for example, the explanation of the absence of asteroids in the Kirkwood gaps. He claims that any account of how such explanations are possible that avoids mathematical commitments would require hard road nominalism, that is, showing how one can eliminate reference to mathematical entities. Replies include Bueno 2012, Yablo 2012, Leng 2012, and the rejoinder Colyvan 2012a. Bueno claims that the mathematics used in scientific explanations only plays a descriptive role and not an explanatory role. Yablo distinguishes three degrees of mathematical involvement in physical explanation, the third of which entails the existence of mathematical entities but, he claims, it is hard to establish whether it ever obtains. Leng defends the possibility of accounting for mathematical explanations nominalistically and emphasizes the importance of structural explanations, which according to her do not commit us to mathematical objects but only to physical objects that instantiate a mathematical structure. Much of the discussion in this area, which addresses whether the mathematics present in the formulation of scientific theories or mathematical explanations offered in science is eliminable, is deeply related to so-called indispensability arguments.

There is actually a variety of classical indispensability arguments (see Colyvan 2001 and Panza and Sereni 2016) but the general structure of the argument runs as follows. One begins with the premise that mathematics is indispensable for our best science. But, second premise, we ought to believe our best theories. Thus, we ought to be committed to the kind of entities that our best theories quantify over. In general this is an argument in favor of Platonism, as our best science quantifies over mathematical entities.

There are many ways in which one can attempt to block the argument. However, the key feature related to our discussion is the following. Several versions of the indispensability argument rely on a holistic conception of scientific theories according to which the ontological commitments of the theory is determined by looking at all the existential claims implied by the theory. However, no attention is paid to how the different parts of the theory might be responsible for different posits and to the different roles that the latter might play. Baker 2005 offers a version of the indispensability argument that does not depend on holism. Baker starts from a debate between Colyvan (2001, 2002) and Melia (2000, 2002) that saw both authors agreeing that the prospects for a successful platonist use of the indispensability argument rests on examples from scientific practice in which the postulation of mathematical objects results in an increase of those theoretical virtues which are provided by the postulation of theoretical entities. Both authors agree that among such theoretical virtues is explanatory power. Baker believes that such explanations exist but also argues that the cases presented in Colyvan 2001 fail to be genuine cases of mathematical explanations of physical phenomena. Most of his article is devoted to the specific case study from evolutionary biology concerning the life-cycle of the so-called ‘periodical’ cicada, which was described in section 1. Recall that the question of interest was why the life cycle periods of such cicadas are prime numbers and that the answer appealed to evolutionary facts and mathematical properties of prime numbers. After the reconstruction of the explanation, Baker concludes that:

The explanation makes use of specific ecological facts, general biological laws, and number theoretic result. My claim is that the purely mathematical component [prime periods minimize intersection (compared to non-prime periods)] is both essential to the overall explanation and genuinely explanatory on its own right. In particular it explains why prime periods are evolutionary advantageous in this case. (2005, 233)

Such explanations give a new twist to the indispensability argument. The argument now runs as follows.

- There are genuinely mathematical explanations of empirical phenomena
- We ought to be committed to the theoretical posits postulated by such explanations; thus,
- We ought to be committed to the entities postulated by the mathematics in question.

The argument has not gone unchallenged. Indeed, Leng 2005 tries to resist the conclusion by blocking premise b). She accepts a) but questions the claim that the role of mathematics in such explanations commits us to the real existence (as opposed to a fictional one) of the posits. This, she argues, will be granted when one realizes that both Colyvan and Baker infer illegitimately from the existence of the mathematical explanation that the statements grounding the explanation are true. She claims that mathematical explanations need not have a true explanans and consequently the objects posited by such explanations need not exist (see now also Leng 2010, chapter 9). By focusing on inference to the best explanation, Saatsi 2007 also resists the implication that scientific realism forces a commitment to mathematical Platonism. Another challenge has been raised by Bangu 2008, who claims that mathematical language is essential to the formulation of the question to be answered (“why is the life cycle period prime?”) and thus that the argument begs the question against the nominalist. The existence of numbers and properties of numbers is already assumed in the acceptance of the statement “the life cycle period is prime”. A similar objection to any attempt to use mathematical explanations in physics for inferring the existence of the mathematical entities involved in the explanation had already been raised in 1978b by Steiner, who had discarded such arguments with the observation that what needed explanation could not even be described without use of the mathematical language. Thus, the existence of mathematical explanations of empirical phenomena could not be used to infer the existence of mathematical entities, for this very existence was presupposed in the description of the fact to be explained. Indeed, he endorsed a line of argument originating from Quine and Goodman according to which “we cannot say what the world would be like without numbers, because describing any thinkable experience (except for utter emptiness) presupposes their existence.” (1978b, 20)

Among the most recent contributions arising from Baker’s 2005 article we have Daly and Langford 2009, Baker 2009a, 2015, 2016a, 2017a, 2017b, Baker and Colyvan 2011, Saatsi 2010, Rizza 2011, Pincock 2012, Bangu 2013, Baron 2014, Marcus 2013, Tallant 2013, and Wakil and Justus 2017. We can only provide here a very short summary of the main positions. Daly and Langford side with Melia to claim that the role of positing concrete unobservables in science allows the explanation of the behavior of observable facts. By contrast, mathematics has no such explanatory value: it merely ‘indexes’ physical facts. Against Baker they argue that the appearance of primes in the cicadas example is only due to the decision to measure those periods in years but that a different choice of measure (say, seasons or months) would give rise to non-prime numbers, thereby showing that Melia’s indexing strategy can also apply to the cicadas example. Baker and Colyvan 2011 reassert the claim on the existence of mathematical explanations of scientific phenomena and argue that Daly and Langford’s strategy is only plausible in extremely simple cases and that the ‘index strategy’ does not square with the complexities of mathematical and scientific practice. In particular, they also make appeal to the existence of mathematical explanations of mathematical facts, for which see below. Baker 2009a defends the ‘enhanced indispensability arguments’ against criticisms by Daly and Langford, Bangu, Leng, and Saatsi. Saatsi 2010 emphasizes the representational role of mathematics and criticizes the alleged explanatory role of mathematics in the explanation of empirical phenomena such as the honeycomb case (see below) and the cicadas case. Rizza 2011 is also deflationary about the alleged ontological consequence of the role of mathematics in the cicadas case; however he does not deny the centrality of mathematical concepts in constructing explanations. Finally, Pincock 2012, chapter 10, also rejects the cogency of various formulations of the enhanced indispensability argument. The objection is that inference to the best explanation for novel abstract entities requires that those new entities are needed to explain the phenomenon in question. But in the cases discussed in this debate, there is no explanatory value to adding the natural numbers or the real numbers to our theories, over and above nominalistically acceptable surrogates (see Pincock 2012, 212).

Another reaction to Baker’s argument is provided by Tallant 2013 which, just as Rizza, 2011, defends a ‘piecemeal’ strategy for nominalism, namely to deflate the challenge posed by the cicada case through a nominalization of prime number talk using mereological reformulations of the number-theoretic results. A challenge against this strategy is offered by Baker 2017b who claims that the entanglement of mathematics in scientific explanation is much deeper than has been realized so far and it extends to mathematical properties that, in addition to having empirical consequences, are consequences of the mathematical theorems appealed to explicitly in the explanations. The claims rely on an explanation of the periods of magicicadas that improves on the original version given in Baker 2005.

Baker 2016, still relying on the periodical cicada explanation, argues that mathematics can sometimes reduce the ontological commitment to concrete entities and poses a challenge to nominalism, especially the piecemeal nominalism described above, based on that observation. Finally, Baker 2017a argues that the mathematical component in the cicada case and similar cases, when properly articulated, is ‘about’ general facts as opposed to individual facts.

Modified versions of the indispensability argument stressing the importance of the indispensability of mathematics for explanations in science were considered, before Baker, by the nominalist Field as a challenge to the platonist use of such arguments. Field (1989, 14–20) accepts the cogency of this type of inference to the best explanation but he argued (Field 1980) that platonist mathematics could be replaced by a nominalistically acceptable theory that was sufficient for the development of classical mechanics. In addition, the nominalistic replacement would also have the virtue of providing ‘intrinsic’ explanations of the physical phenomena (for a probing discussion of ‘intrinsic explanation’ see Marcus 2013). That led to much discussion as to how far Field’s program could be pushed. Malament 1982 had objected that the obstacles to the nominalization of phase-space theories in Hamiltonian mechanics seemed insuperable. Lyon and Colyvan (2008) go beyond Malament’s claim by arguing that even if a nominalistic reconstruction of phase-space theories were available, the nominalist would still have to show that such reconstruction can yield the explanations yielded by the non-nominalistic version(s). They believe that the nominalist will fail in this task and make a plausible case for their thesis by providing a case study of a physical system known as the Hénon-Heiles system (incidentally, this same case study is used by Molinini 2011 to test the theories of mathematical explanation offered by Steiner, Kitcher and van Fraassen). The system describes the motion of a star around a galactic center. Their claim is that the phase-space analysis of the system provides explanations that cannot be provided by any nominalist reconstruction. At the end of their article, Lyon and Colyvan also review a few possible moves the nominalist can make in response. One such move would deny that mathematical explanations have any bearing on physical explanations and that some bridge principles linking the mathematics to the physical system, are required. They reply:

Our response to this is to agree that in order for the mathematical explanation to be an explanation of empirical facts, some appropriate bridge principles are required. But this does not mean that the mathematical explanation is restricted to pure mathematics. Yes, there is a great deal of work being done by the bridge principles in order for the mathematical explanations to be explanations of physical facts, and there is a great deal to be said about the nature and adequacy of these bridge principles, but this does not reduce the importance of the mathematical explanation in question. Indeed, the bridge principles in question are mappings between physical systems and mathematical structures, and so are themselves mathematical entities (i.e., mappings). If the nominalist hopes to defuse the situation by having the bridge principles shoulder some of the explanatory load, this seems a poor way to proceed. (p. 15)

Lyon and Colyvan grant that while in mathematical explanations of empirical facts such bridge principles are required, they “do not seem to do anything more than allow the transmission of the mathematical explanations to the empirical domain” (p. 15).

Saatsi 2017 criticizes Lyon and Colyvan 2008 by questioning the conclusiveness of the appeal to phase spaces in bringing about explanations which would allow the deployment of an enhanced indispensability argument. After proposing a strengthening of the indispensability argument by appealing to attractors in dynamical system theory, he concludes that understanding how explanations work in dynamical system theory undermines the Platonist use of the enhanced indispensability argument.

According to Lyon and Colyvan, a proper account of explanations in science requires an analysis of mathematical explanations in pure mathematics. Indeed, this was also the major intuition behind Steiner’s account of mathematical explanation in science offered in 1978b, whose central idea was that a mathematical explanation of a physical fact is one in which a mathematical explanation of a mathematical fact results when we remove the physics. Steiner used as central example for his analysis Euler’s theorem on the existence of an instantaneous axis of rotation in rigid body kinematics. Baker 2009a discusses briefly Steiner’s account and declares it ‘seriously flawed’(p. 623) but Molinini 2012 is more enlightening as it subjects the Euler example used by Steiner to a detailed scrutiny and compares alternative explanatory proofs of the same result. Steiner’s theory, as we have mentioned, requires an account of mathematical explanations of mathematical facts, which he provided in Steiner 1978a. It is important to add that serious objections have been raised to the idea that mathematical explanations of scientific facts require a mathematical explanation of a mathematical fact as part of the explanation. For instance, Baker 2015 argues against Steiner’s account by pointing out that in the cicada case or in the honeycomb cell case only the mathematical results are appealed to but not their proofs.

Lyon & Colyvan 2008 also contains a much discussed example from evolutionary biology. Why do hive-bee honeycombs have a hexagonal structure? The nature of the question is contrastive: why hexagonal as opposed to, say, any other polygonal figure or combination thereof? Part of the explanation depends on evolutionary facts. Bees that use less wax and thus spend less energy have a better chance at evolving via natural selection. The explanation is completed by pointing out that ‘any partition of the plane into regions of equal area has perimeter at least that of the regular hexagonal honeycomb tiling’. Thus, the hexagonal tiling is optimal with respect to dividing the plane into equal areas and minimizing the perimeter. This fact, known as the ‘honeycomb conjecture’ was recently proved in Hales 2001 (see also Hales 2000). The explanation of the biological fact seems to depend essentially on a mathematical fact. Just like the cicada example, this case has been extensively discussed in the literature.

Some have questioned whether the example is a case of genuine explanation. For instance, Räz 2013 points out that the honeycomb theorem is a two-dimensional theorem but that the real-life problem must address the three-dimensional structure of the honeycomb cells. In Räz 2017 several alternative scientific explanations of the structure of the honeycomb cells are discussed and used to evaluate the positions of Pincock (2012) and Baker (2015) on the kind of optimization result that is needed to explain the structure of the honeycomb cells (Pincock, contra Baker, claims that the optimality of the hexagonal shape among regular polygons is sufficient and there is no need to appeal to the general honeycomb conjecture). Wakil and Justus (2017, 917) criticize both the cicada example as well as the honeycomb example on the basis that both examples commit the optimality fallacy, namely ‘assuming a trait exists because it was selected for as a solution to a biological optimization problem.’

Lyon 2012 sketches a more general theory of mathematical explanations of scientific facts. Starting from the, by now, standard stock of examples discussed in the literature on mathematical explanations of scientific facts (the bees, the cicadas, the sunflower seeds, the bridges of Königsberg, the Kirkwood gaps, the Plateau soap film, etc.), Lyon thinks that they share important properties that can be captured through a distinction already available in the literature on explanation in general philosophy of science. The distinction is that formulated by Jackson and Pettit (1990) between process explanations and program explanations. Lyon’s observation is that in all the standard examples of mathematical explanations listed above there are, in addition to the mathematical explanations, alternative explanations that are causal. Such alternative explanations work at a level of granularity (indicating all the spatio-temporal coordinates, forces acting on the bodies etc.) that is not present in the mathematical explanations. Following the lead of Jackson and Pettit, Lyon calls the former process explanations and the latter program explanation:

Roughly a process explanation is one that gives a detailed account of the actual causes that led to the event to be explained. A program explanation, on the other hand, is one that cites a property or entity that, although not causally efficacious, ensures the instantiation of a causally efficacious property or entity that is an actual cause of the explanation. (Jackson and Pettit 1990, 8)

While Lyon does not claim that all mathematical explanations in science are process program explanations, he argues that the cases that have been at the center of attention in the discussion of mathematical explanations of scientific phenomena are special cases of program explanation, namely those in which the mathematics is indispensable to the programming. Lyon also defends the thesis that what characterizes mathematical explanations of scientific facts is a certain modal stability (see also the discussion of Lange 2013c in the previous subsection) which account for their being good explanations, an explanation that does not have to be altered even when the causal history for the occurrence of the event (say, the cracking of a glass flask) had been different from the actual ones. Saatsi 2012 denies that the cases analyzed by Lyon fit the Jackson-Pettit model of program explanation and thus resists Lyon’s use of the examples to buttress a realistic interpretation of the mathematics used in those explanations. For further discussion of program and process explanations applied to logical explanations of scientific facts see Baron and Colyvan 2016.

One of the aspects of the enhanced indispensability argument that has generated much attention is that the argument seems to presuppose a form of inference to the best explanation. An inference to the best explanation licenses, when one is presented with several alternative explanations of the same phenomenon, the acceptance as true of the best among such explanations. In addition to raising the crucial issue of determining whether a certain argument is a mathematical explanation of a scientific fact, we are also confronted with the further issue of how to rank alternative explanations and of whether the appeal to inference to the best explanation in arguing for scientific realism carries over to an argument for mathematical realism. Such inferences have been at the center of much discussion in philosophy of science (see Lipton 2004). In the context of enhanced indispensability arguments, they were also discussed, in addition to several of the articles cited so far, in several articles contained in the special issue of Synthese (2016, n. 193) edited by Molinini, Pataut, and Sereni (see Molinini 2016, Sereni 2016, Busch and Morrison 2016, Hunt 2016, and Molinini, Pataut, and Sereni 2016 for a lucid introduction). Molinini 2016 uses alternative mathematical explanations of scientific facts in kinematics (using a case study from Euler studied in Molinini 2012) and special relativity (using a case study on the FitzGerald-Lorentz contraction studied in detail in Friend and Molinini 2015) to put pressure on the inference to the best explanation underlying the enhanced indispensability argument. The existence of alternative mathematical explanations of the same phenomenon, appealing to two different mathematical entities, speaks against the indispensability of any of those entities for providing an explanation of the phenomenon in question. He concludes: “the notion of explanatory power of mathematics in science has no ontological import and cannot be used in EIA [enhanced indispensability argument]” (pp. 420-421). Sereni 2016, a reply to Molinini 2016, offers some important reflections on the issue of the equivalent explanations problem. The issue of compatible mathematical explanations (positing the same physical ontology but appealing to different mathematical entities) is also central to Hunt 2016 where Hunt argues that ‘in cases of compatible mathematical explanations, IBE cannot establish ontological commitment to mathematical entities’ (p. 452). Hunt’s article is a reply to Busch and Morrison 2016 (see also Busch 2011), which focuses on the parity of reasoning, or lack thereof, between scientific and mathematical realists. Indeed, they claim that inference to the best explanation is used differently in arguments for scientific realism from the way it is used in arguments for mathematical realism (see also Colyvan 2001, 2006) and that this undermines the use of the enhanced indispensability argument as establishing Platonism.

Connected to the evaluation of indispensability arguments in philosophy of mathematics are also a set of articles comparing indispensability arguments in moral theory and philosophy of mathematics contained in the collection Leibowitz and Sinclair 2016 (see the introduction to the volume by the editors and contributions by Miller, Liggins, Roberts, Leng, Baker, and Enoch).

Before concluding this section, let me mention a few additional contributions. Bangu 2013 proposes a challenge for the nominalist by offering a simple example in terms of games between two players and claims that the nominalist, unlike the realist, is unable to account for the common features of certain rearrangements that can only be explained by reference to a common mathematical structure of the rearrangements. Marcus 2013 distinguishes epistemic and metaphysical readings of the explanatory indispensability argument and claims that once one disambiguates the two readings, the explanatory indispensability argument is no improvement on the standard Quinean indispensability argument. Baron 2015 argues for the validity of the following conditional: “if there are extramathematical explanations, then the core thesis of the access problem is false” and claims that far-reaching conclusions follow for the Platonist (a solution to the access problem) and the nominalist (who can use the conditional to reject the existence of extramathematical explanations). Baron 2016a is an exploratory investigation on the nature of the ontological dependence relating mathematicand and empirical facts in a genuine mathematical explanation of scientific facts. The topic is also connected to the general issue of grounding (see Raven 2015 for an overview on grounding and Liggins 2016 and Plebani 2016 for further contributions on indispensability arguments and grounding).

Friend and Molinini 2015 generalize the question of mathematical explanations of scientific phenomena to two further questions: are there wholly (as opposed to partial, as in the standard cases such as the cicada case) mathematical explanations of scientific phenomena? And: are there wholly mathematical explanations of scientific theories? They answer in the affirmative using as a case study the work on the axiomatization of relativity theory carried out by Hajnal Andréka, Judit Madarász, István Németi and Gergely Székely.

We now turn to mathematical explanations within mathematics.

## 4. Mathematical explanations within mathematics

Much mathematical activity is driven by factors other than justificatory aims such as establishing the truth of a mathematical fact. In many cases knowledge that something is the case will be considered unsatisfactory and this will lead mathematicians to probe the situation further to look for better explanations of the facts (see Atiyah’s vivid account of an instance of this in Minio 1996, 17). This might take the form of, just to give a few examples, providing alternative proofs for known results, giving an account for surprising analogies, or recasting an entire area of mathematics on a new basis in the pursuit of a more satisfactory ‘explanatory’ account of the area. The phenomenology of the variety of such explanatory activities has been partially investigated in Sandborg (1997, ch. 1) and Hafner & Mancosu 2005 (see also Robinson 2000 for a cognitive analysis of proof emphasizing explanatory factors, Lange 2017 for further examples, and Colyvan 2012b for a textbook presentation).

Consider for instance the case of Gregory Brumfiel, a real algebraic geometer. In his book “Partially ordered rings and semi-algebraic geometry” (1979), Brumfiel contrasts different methods for proving theorems about real closed fields. One of them relies on a decision procedure for a particular axiomatization of the theory of real closed fields. By this method one can find elementary proofs of sentences formulated in the language of that theory—at least in principle, since, as Brumfiel remarks, “it certainly might be very tedious, if not physically impossible, to work out this elementary proof.” (166)

Another method of proof consists in using a so-called transfer principle which allows one to infer the truth of a sentence for all real closed fields from its being true in one real closed field, say the real numbers. Despite the fact that the transfer principle is a very efficient tool, Brumfiel does not make any use of it, and he is very clear about this.

In this book we absolutely and unequivocally refuse to give proofs of this second type. Every result is proved uniformly for all real closed ground fields. Our philosophical objection to transcendental proofs is that they may logically prove a result but they do not explain it, except for the special case of real numbers. (Brumfiel 1979, 166)

Brumfiel prefers a third proof method which aims at giving non-transcendental proofs of purely algebraic results. This does not mean that he restricts himself to just elementary methods; he does use stronger tools but it is crucial that they apply uniformly to all real closed fields.

While one could easily provide myriads of evaluations by mathematicians contrasting explanatory and non-explanatory proofs of the same theorem, it is important to point out that explanations in mathematics do not only come in the form of proofs (this has been also emphasized by D’Alessandro 2018, who however unfortunately ignores claims to this effect in the previous literature on mathematical explanation). In some cases explanations are sought in a major conceptual recasting of an entire discipline. In such situations the major conceptual recasting will also produce new proofs but the explanatoriness of the new proofs is derivative on the conceptual recasting. This leads to a more global (or holistic picture) of explanation than the one based on the focus on individual proofs. Mancosu 2001 describes in detail such a global case of explanatory activity from complex analysis; see also Kitcher 1984 and Tappenden 2005 for additional case studies.

## 5. Mathematical explanations: some historical remarks

Since contributions in analytic philosophy to the study of mathematical explanations date back only to Steiner 1978a, one might suspect that the topic was a byproduct of the Quinean conception of scientific theories (see Resnik & Kushner, 1987, 154). Once mathematics and natural science were placed on the same footing, it became possible to apply a unified methodology to both areas. Thus, it made sense to look for explanations in mathematics just as in natural science. However, this historical reconstruction would be mistaken. Mathematical explanations of mathematical facts have been part of philosophical reflection since Aristotle. We have already seen the distinction Aristotle drew between demonstrations “of the fact” and demonstrations “of the reasoned fact”. Both are logically rigorous but only the latter provide explanations for their results. Aristotle had also claimed that demonstrations “of the reasoned fact” occur in mathematics. On account of what we said in section 2, these demonstrations can be called “explanatory” demonstrations. Aristotle’s position on explanatory proofs in mathematics was already challenged in ancient times. Proclus, in his “Commentary on the first book of Euclid’s Elements”, informs us on this point. He reports: “Many persons have thought that geometry does not investigate the cause, that is, does not ask the question ‘Why?’” (Proclus 1970, 158–159; for more on Proclus on mathematical explanation see Harari 2008). Proclus himself singles out certain propositions in Euclid’s “Elements”, such as I.32, as not being demonstrations “of the reasoned fact”. Euclid I.32 states that the sum of the internal angles of a triangle is equal to two right angles. If the demonstration were given by a scientific syllogism in the Aristotelean sense, the middle of the syllogism would have to provide the ‘cause’ of the fact. But Proclus argues that Euclid’s proof does not satisfy these Aristotelian constraints, for the appeal to the auxiliary lines and exterior angles is not ‘causal’:

What is called “proof” we shall find sometimes has the properties of a demonstration in being able to establish what is sought by means of definitions as middle terms, and this is the perfect form of demonstration; but sometimes it attempts to prove by means of signs. This point should not be overlooked. Although geometrical propositions always derive their necessity from the matter under investigation, they do not always reach their results through demonstrative methods. For example, when [from] the fact that the exterior angle of a triangle is equal to the two opposite interior angles it is shown that the sum of the interior angles of a triangle is equal to two right angles, how can this be called a demonstration based on the cause? Is not the middle term used here only as a sign? For even though there be no exterior angle, the interior angles are equal to two right angles; for it is a triangle even if its side is not extended. (Proclus 1970, 161–2)

In addition, Proclus also held that proofs by contradiction were not demonstrations “of the reasoned fact”. The rediscovery of Proclus in the Renaissance was to spark a far-reaching debate on the causality of mathematical demonstrations referred to above as the Quaestio de Certitudine Mathematicarum. The first shot was fired by Alessandro Piccolomini in 1547. Piccolomini’s aim was to disarm a traditional claim to the effect that mathematics derives its certainty on account of its use of “scientific demonstrations” in the Aristotelean sense (such proofs were known as “potissimae” in the Renaissance). Since “potissimae” demonstrations had to be causal, Piccolomini attacked the argument by arguing that mathematical demonstrations are not causal. This led to one of the most interesting epistemological debates of the Renaissance and the seventeenth century. Those denying the “causality” of mathematical demonstrations (Piccolomini, Pereyra, Gassendi etc.) argued by providing specific examples of demonstrations from mathematical practice (usually from Euclid’s Elements) which, they claimed, could not be reconstructed as causal reasonings in the Aristotelian sense. By contrast, those hoping to restore “causality” to mathematics aimed at showing that the alleged counterexamples could easily be accommodated within the realm of “causal” demonstrations (Clavius, Barrow, etc.). The historical developments have been presented in detail in Mancosu 1996 and Mancosu 2000. What is more important here is to appreciate that the basic intuition—the contraposition between explanatory and non-explanatory demonstrations—had a long and successful history and influenced both mathematical and philosophical developments well beyond the seventeenth century. For instance Mancosu 1999 shows that Bolzano and Cournot, two major philosophers of mathematics in the nineteenth century, construe the central problem of philosophy of mathematics as that of accounting for the distinction between between explanatory and non-explanatory demonstrations. In the case of Bolzano this takes the form of a theory of Grund (ground) and Folge (consequence). Kitcher 1975 was the first to read Bolzano as propounding a theory of mathematical explanations (see Betti 2010 and Roski 2017 for recent contributions). In the case of Cournot this is spelled out in terms of the opposition between “ordre logique” and “ordre rationnel” (see Cournot 1851). In Bolzano’s case, the aim of providing a reconstruction of parts of analysis and geometry, so that the exposition would use only “explanatory” proofs, also led to major mathematical results, such as his purely analytic proof of the intermediate value theorem.

In conclusion to this section, we should also point out that there is another tradition of thinking of explanation in mathematics that includes Mill, Lakatos, Russell and Gödel. These authors are motivated by a conception of mathematics (and/or its foundations) as hypothetico-deductive in nature and this leads them to construe mathematical activity in analogy with how explanatory hypotheses occur in science (see Mancosu 2001 for more details). Related to inductivism are Cellucci 2008 and 2017, which emphasize the connection between mathematical explanation and discovery.

## 6. Two classical models for mathematical explanation: Steiner and Kitcher

In section 4 it was pointed out that two major forms of the search for explanations in mathematical practice occur at the level of comparison between different proofs of the same result and in the conceptual recasting of major areas. These two types of explanatory activity lead to two different conceptions of explanation. These conceptions could be characterized as local and global. The point is that in the former case explanatoriness is primarily a (local) property of proofs whereas in the latter it is a (global) property of the whole theory or framework and the proofs are judged explanatory on account of their being part of the framework. While these two types of explanatory activity do not exhaust the varieties of mathematical explanations that occur in practice, the contraposition between local and global captures well the major difference between the two major classical accounts of mathematical explanation, those of Steiner and Kitcher (more recent accounts will be discussed in section 7). While we shall emphasize the local/global dichotomy, it is important to add that there are other ways to conceptualize the major alternatives in the theory of mathematical explanation. For instance, Kim 1994 uses the contraposition between ‘explanatory internalism’ and ‘explanatory externalism’ to give a taxonomy of the different accounts of scientific explanation. Whereas for ‘explanatory internalism’ explanations are activities internal to an epistemic corpus (a theory or set of beliefs), an ‘explanatory externalist’ will look for some ontic relations that ground the explanatory relations reflected in linguistic ascriptions of explanatoriness. This taxonomy is orthogonal to the local/global taxonomy and we only mention here that the spirit of Kitcher’s theory of explanation is ‘internalist’ whereas that of Steiner is ‘externalist’.

Before discussing them, it should also be pointed out that other models of scientific explanation can be thought to extend to mathematical explanation. They will be discussed in section 7.

### 6.1 A local model of explanation: Steiner

Steiner proposed his model of mathematical explanation in 1978a. In developing his own account of explanatory proof in mathematics he discusses—and rejects—a number of initially plausible criteria for explanation, e.g. the (greater degree of) abstractness or generality of a proof, its visualizability, and its genetic aspect that would give rise to the discovery of the result. In contrast, Steiner takes up the idea “that to explain the behaviour of an entity, one deduces the behavior from the essence or nature of the entity” (Steiner 1978a, 143). In order to avoid the notorious difficulties in defining the concepts of essence and essential (or necessary) property, which, moreover, do not seem to be useful in mathematical contexts anyway since all mathematical truths are regarded as necessary, Steiner introduces the concept of characterizing property. (Let me mention as an aside that Kit Fine distinguishes between essential and necessary properties and that perhaps the distinction could be exploited in this context). By characterizing property Steiner means “a property unique to a given entity or structure within a family or domain of such entities or structures”, where the notion of family is taken as undefined. Hence what distinguishes an explanatory proof from a non-explanatory one is that only the former involves such a characterizing property. In Steiner’s words: “an explanatory proof makes reference to a characterizing property of an entity or structure mentioned in the theorem, such that from the proof it is evident that the result depends on the property”. Furthermore, an explanatory proof is generalizable in the following sense. Varying the relevant feature (and hence a certain characterizing property) in such a proof gives rise to an array of corresponding theorems, which are proved—and explained—by an array of “deformations” of the original proof. Thus Steiner arrives at two criteria for explanatory proofs, i.e. dependence on a characterizing property and generalizability through varying of that property (Steiner 1978a, 144, 147).

Steiner’s model was criticized by Resnik & Kushner 1987 who questioned the absolute distinction between explanatory and non-explanatory proofs and argued that such a distinction can only be context-dependent. They also provided counterexamples to the criteria defended by Steiner. In Hafner & Mancosu 2005 it is argued that Resnik and Kushner’s criticisms are insufficient as a challenge to Steiner for they rely on ascribing explanatoriness to specific proofs based not on evaluations given by practicing mathematicians but rather relying on the intuitions of the authors. By contrast, Hafner and Mancosu build their case against Steiner using a case of explanation from real analysis, recognized as such in mathematical practice, which concerns the proof of Kummer’s convergence criterion. They argue that the explanatoriness of the proof of the result in question cannot be accounted for in Steiner’s model and this criticism is instrumental in giving a careful and detailed scrutiny of various conceptual components of the model. In addition, further discussion of Steiner’s account is provided in Weber & Verhoeven 2002, Pincock 2015b, Salverda 2017, and Gijsbers 2017.

### 6.2 A holistic model of explanation: Kitcher

Kitcher is a well known defender of an account of scientific explanation as theoretical unification. Kitcher sees one of the virtues of his viewpoint to be that it can also be applied to explanation in mathematics, unlike other theories of scientific explanation whose central concepts, say causality or laws of nature, do not seem relevant to mathematics. Kitcher has not devoted any single article to mathematical explanation and thus his position can only be gathered from what he says about mathematics in his major articles on scientific explanation. In Kitcher 1989, he uses unification as the overarching model for explanation both in science and mathematics:

The fact that the unification approach provides an account of explanation, and explanatory asymmetries, in mathematics stands to its credit. (Kitcher 1989, 437)

Kitcher claims that behind the account of explanation given by Hempel’s covering law model—the official model of explanation for logical positivism—there was an unofficial model which saw explanation as unification. What should one expect from an account of explanation? Kitcher in 1981 points out two things. First, a theory of explanation should account for how science advances our understanding of the world. Secondly, it should help us in evaluating or arbitrating disputes in science. He claims that the covering law model fails on both counts and he proposes that his unification account fares much better.

Kitcher found inspiration in Friedman 1974 where Friedman put forward the idea that understanding of the world is achieved by science by reducing the number of facts we take as brute:

this is the essence of scientific explanation—science increases our understanding of the world by reducing the total number of independent phenomena that we have to accept as ultimate or given. A world with fewer independent phenomena is, other things equal, more comprehensible than one with more. (Friedman 1974, 15)

Friedman tried to make this intuition more precise by substituting linguistic descriptions in place of an appeal to phenomena and laws. Kitcher disagrees with the specific details of Friedman’s proposal but thinks that the general intuition is correct. He modifies Friedman’s proposal by emphasizing that what lies behind unification is the reduction of the number of argument patterns used in providing explanations while being as comprehensive as possible in the number of phenomena explained:

Understanding the phenomena is not simply a matter of reducing the “fundamental incomprehensibilities” but of seeing connections, common patterns, in what initially appeared to be different situations. Here the switch in conception from premise-conclusion pairs to derivations proves vital. Science advances our understanding of nature by showing us how to derive descriptions of many phenomena, using the same patterns of derivation again and again, and, in demonstrating this, it teaches us how to reduce the number of types of facts that we have to accept as ultimate (or brute). So the criterion of unification I shall try to articulate will be based on the idea thatE(K) is a set of derivations that makes the best tradeoff between minimizing the number of patterns of derivation employed and maximizing the number of conclusions generated. (Kitcher 1989, p.432)

Let us make this a little bit more formal. Let us start with a
set *K* of beliefs assumed to be consistent and deductively
closed (informally one can think of this as a set of statements
endorsed by an ideal scientific community at a specific moment in
time; Kitcher 1981, p.75). A systematization of *K* is any set
of arguments that derive some sentences in *K* from other
sentences of *K*. The explanatory store over *K*,
*E*(*K*), is the best systematization of *K*
(Kitcher here makes an idealization by claiming
that *E*(*K*) is unique). Corresponding to different
systematizations we have different degrees of unification. The
highest degree of unification is that given
by *E*(*K*). But according to what criteria can a
systematization be judged to be the best? There are three factors: the
number of patterns, the stringency of the patterns and the set of
consequences derivable from the unification.

We cannot enter here into the technicalities of Kitcher’s model. Unlike Steiner’s model of mathematical explanation, Kitcher’s account of mathematical explanation has not been extensively discussed (in contrast to the extensive discussion of his model in the context of general philosophy of science). A general discussion is found in Tappenden 2005 but not a detailed analysis. The only exception is Hafner & Mancosu 2008, where Kitcher’s model is tested in light of Brumfiel’s case from real algebraic geometry, described in section 4. The authors argue that Kitcher’s model makes predictions about explanatoriness that go against specific cases in mathematical practice (see also Pincock 2015b).

## 7. Recent developments

The developments of the last decade take on board the suggestion (see Mancosu 2008b) to follow a “bottom up” approach to mathematical explanation, investigating cases considered explanatory in mathematical practice and resisting the temptation to argue “top down” by proposing encompassing approaches to mathematical explanation without a previous extensive analysis of individual case studies. However, interest in the “top down” approaches is still lively and informs the discussion of many particular case studies. Apart from a single dissenting voice (Zelcer 2013, see also the reply Weber and Frans 2017), contributors in this area all accept mathematical explanation of mathematical facts as a datum about mathematical practice that philosophers of mathematics have to investigate.

Marc Lange (2009a) has argued that a whole class of
arguments fail to be explanatory, namely arguments by mathematical
induction. Letting *A*(*x*) be a property, mathematical
induction licenses the conclusion that for
all *n*, *A*(*n*), from the premises *A*(1) and
for all *n*, (if *A*(*n*)
then *A*(*n*′)). Lange’s argument rests on contrasting
ordinary mathematical induction with a form of upward and downward
induction from a fixed number *k* (*k*≠1; say, 5), which is
deductively equivalent to ordinary induction. He then claims that if
proofs by ordinary mathematical induction are explanatory so are
proofs by upward and downward induction from a fixed number
*k*≠1. But if so, one ends up, so the argument concludes, with
*P*(1) part of the explanation for *P*(*k*)
and *P*(*k*) part of the explanation for *P*(1) and
this contradicts the non-circularity of mathematical explanations
(which is one of the premises about mathematical explanations defended
by Lange). By reductio, the original proof by ordinary mathematical
induction is not explanatory. Baker 2009b rejects the claim that the
proof by ordinary mathematical induction and the proof by upward and
downward induction from *k* are equally explanatory. He points
out that the latter type of induction is more
‘disjunctive’ than the former and contains elements that
are irrelevant to the explanation. Cariani 2011 (see Other Internet
Resources) also focuses on the explanatory asymmetry between the two
types of induction but with considerations different from those of
Baker. He insists on ‘simplicity’ as the explanatory
tie-breaker between proofs of the same theorem by appeal to the two
different types of induction and concludes with considerations leading
one to suspect that there is no global answer to the question of
whether proofs by mathematical induction are explanatory.

Lange’s argument has been also contested in several recent articles such as Hoeltje et al. 2013, Baldwin 2016, and Dougherty 2017. Hoeltje et al. reject what they see as an unacknowledged assumption in Lange’s argument, namely that a universal sentence explains its instances. Baldwin offers positive considerations as to why inductive arguments are explanatory and he also focuses his criticisms of Lange’s argument on the latter’s assumption that an instance of a universal generalization cannot help explain the universal generalization. Dougherty’s line of attack is based on Lange’s need to presuppose a problematic notion of identity of proofs, which he questions using an alternative criterion of identity spelled out using two equivalent characterizations (the first appealing to the language of homotopy type theory and the second using algebraic representatives to proofs).

Lange 2017 (section 3, chapters 7 to 9) brings together several
investigations on mathematical explanation by the same author (see
Lange 2010a, 2010b, 2014, 2015b, 2015c; in what follows, we mainly
reference the book of 2017). Lange’s investigations are characterized
by a rich and varied choice of examples, which lead him to argue that
although mathematical explanations do not fall under a general
pattern, there are interesting classes of explanations. In chapter 7
of Lange 2017, Lange emphasizes the importance of symmetry and
simplicity in mathematical explanations. The idea is that faced with a
result that displays a salient symmetry, the explanation will be the
one that will be able to account for the symmetry of the result by
exploiting a symmetry in the set-up of the problem. Lange gives many
examples (drawn from probability, real analysis, number theory,
complex numbers, geometry etc.) including one concerning d’Alembert’s
theorem (an example of explanation by subsumption under a theorem) to
the effect that in a polynomial equation of *n*-th degree in the
variable *x* and having only real coefficients, the nonreal roots
will always come in pairs (both a non-real root and its complex
conjugate will satisfy the equation). What explains this symmetry? A
non-explanatory proof can be given by algebraic manipulations but this
does not reveal the reason for the result which, according to Lange,
is the fact that the axioms of complex arithmetic are invariant under
substitution of *i* for -*i*. Lange offers similar
considerations, using further case studies from geometry and
combinatorics, for simplicity: if the statement strikes us as simple
then an and explanatory proof should be able to account for it using
simple features of the set up.

In chapter 8 of his book, Lange discusses the notion of mathematical coincidence (see also Lange 2010a, Baker 2009c). Consider the following array of “calculator” numbers:

7 | 8 | 9 |

4 | 5 | 6 |

1 | 2 | 3 |

Consider the numbers generated by juxtaposing each row, column, or
main diagonal with its reverse image. For instance, 123321 or
159951. Every such number (there are sixteen in total) is divisible by
37. Is this a coincidence? Notice that you can check each of the sixteen
numbers and prove that 37 is a factor. But this provides no
explanation. It turns out there is an explanation which is connected
to the fact that each such number can be expressed in terms of
arithmetic progressions of the
form *a*, *a*+*d*, *a*+2*d* (and their
reverse). A theorem by Nummela (1987) shows that divisibility by 37 follows
from a common feature of the sixteen numbers (i.e. they can all be
expressed in the same form). Appealing to this and other examples,
Lange analyzes at length what distinguishes coincidences from
non-coincidences and argues that non-coincidences admit of an
explanatory proof. The analysis brings into play several interesting
features, such as unification, saliency, natural properties in
mathematics, fruitfulness etc. In the process, Lange also argues for
the claim that mathematical explanations are context-dependent since
‘in different contexts different features might be
salient’ (p. 299). Among the claims defended in chapter 8 is
that there are some clear cases that show that purity and explanation
come apart. The topics of purity, fruitfulness, coincidence,
unification, natural properties etc. come together in chapter 9, which
is devoted to Desargues’ plane theorem in projective geometry. Lange
discusses and contrasts proofs of the theorem given in the context of
synthetic geometry, analytic geometry and projective (synthetic)
geometry. He argues that the projective proof, which obtains the
result by projective means from a spatial version of the same result,
provides the required explanation which eludes all the other
proofs. Noteworthy are the connections Lange establishes between
explanation, natural properties, and fruitfulness (see also Tappenden
2008a and 2008b).

Another rich discussion of an example of explanation from mathematical practice has been offered in Pincock 2015b. Pincock focuses on the proof of the impossibility of solving a quintic equation by radicals. Several proofs are looked at and the proof given in terms of Galois theory is singled out as explanatory. Pincock is especially interested in the abstract nature of the explanation, which in his account functions by appeal to an entity that is more abstract than the subject matter of the theorem itself. The proof of the result given in terms of Galois theory, according to Pincock, ‘is an explanatory proof because it invokes a special sort of ontological dependence between distinct mathematical domains.’ (p. 3) As often with accounts that end up appealing to grounding of various sorts, Pincock also does not think that the dependence in question can be explicated in simpler terms.

Another interesting case study is found in Colyvan et al. 2018. There
the main example is the theorem to the effect that, given any
set *X*, there exists a free group over *X* (The Free Group
Theorem). The authors analyze and contrast a constructive proof of the
result and a more abstract but non-constructive proof. They compare
and contrast the two proofs with known models of scientific
explanation and find that the first proof has features in common with
the reductive account of explanation while the second is more in line
with unificationist accounts. They conclude that both proofs have
explanatory virtues. The discussion ends up highlighting the problem
of how to compare and rank the explanatoriness of proofs and claims
that explanatory virtues come in degrees. An additional case study
concerning compactness is provided in Paseau 2010.

In addition to the unification model, other models of scientific explanation have been tested with an eye to mathematical explanation. For instance, Sandborg (1997, 1998) tests van Fraassen’s account of explanation as answers to why-questions by using cases of mathematical explanation. Molinini 2014 subjects Hempel’s D-N model to a probing analysis with respect to how it deals with mathematical explanations (both of scientific facts and of mathematical facts). Frans and Weber 2014 propose to apply mechanistic accounts to mathematical explanations where talk of capacities in the former account is rendered in terms of dependencies in the latter account (the approach is discussed also in Baracco 2017). Reutlinger 2016 and Gijsbers 2017 modify Woodward’s counterfactual theory (by eliminating the appeal to interventions) so as to apply it to mathematical explanation.

## 8. Connections to other debates

A number of fruitful conceptual intersections have been investigated in the recent literature, such as explanation and beauty, explanation and purity, explanation and depth, explanation and inter-theoretic reduction, and explanation and style. It is not my intent here to provide an encompassing overview of the literature on mathematical beauty, purity of methods, understanding in mathematics, mathematical style, and mathematical depth. We simply refer to one or two such background studies and encourage the reader to explore the bibliography of the studies referred to.

Interest in mathematical beauty, and especially the beauty of mathematical proofs has received much emphasis of late (see Cellucci 2014, Raman-Sundström et al. 2016, Inglis and Aberdein 2015, Thomas 2017). The most extensive studies connecting mathematical beauty and explanation are Giaquinto 2016, Lange 2016, and Dutilh Novaes, 2018. Giaquinto argues against what might be a prima facie persuasive claim, namely that explanatory proofs and beautiful proofs tend to be the same. He claims that there are reasons to doubt that explanatory proofs tend to be beautiful and insufficient evidence for establishing the converse implication. Lange also compares virtues of mathematical proofs such as beauty and explanatoriness and concludes that ‘the features of a proof that would contribute to its explanatory power would also contribute to its beauty, but that these two virtues are not the same; a beautiful proof need not be explanatory.’ By contrast, Dutilh Novaes develops an account of mathematical beauty in terms of explanatoriness within the conceptual framework of a dialogical theory of proofs and exploiting the concept of ‘functional beauty’. She claims that ‘when mathematicians attribute aesthetic properties to proofs, they are by and large (though not entirely) tracking the epistemic property of explanatoriness.’

The notion of purity of method has long been of interest to mathematicians and philosophers (for recent contributions see Detlefsen and Arana 2011 and Arana and Mancosu 2012). Informally, the notion can be explained s follows. Given a statement of a certain area of mathematics, one would like a proof of the statement, if provable, to make use of conceptual resources that are not ‘foreign’ to the content of the statement. For instance, given a statement of elementary number theory one would like its proof to make use of resources that belong to elementary number theory. Proofs of an elementary number theoretic statements that appeal to complex analysis or topological dynamics would seem to appeal to concepts that are ‘foreign’ to the subject matter. This is one way to draw the pure/impure distinction in mathematics. The relation between explanatoriness and purity has been emphasized in Skow 2015 and Lange 2014. Skow, using a proof of the Pythagorean theorem that relies on physical principles, argues that there are explanations of mathematical results that rely on physical principles and are thus not pure. As mentioned above, using the case of Desargues’ theorem, Lange claims that the proof of Desargues’ plane theorem that uses properties of projective space is explanatory but impure.

We have already seen when discussing Kitcher and Friedman that the notion of understanding is tied to that of explanation. There has been recent work on mathematical and scientific understanding (see, for instance, Avigad 2008, de Regt and Dieks 2005, de Regt, Leonelli, and Eigner 2013, de Regt 2017). In connection to mathematical explanation, understanding has been discussed in Molinini 2011, Cellucci 2014, Delariviére et al. 2017.

Mathematical depth was the subject of a special issue
of *Philosophia Mathematica* published in 2015. For connections
between mathematical depth and explanation in mathematics see Lange
2015c.

The connection between inter-theoretic reduction and explanation is familiar from philosophy of science. Rantala 1992 and D’Alessandro 2017 provide two contributions in the case of mathematics. In particular, D’Alessandro claims that the standard reduction of arithmetic to set theory is non-explanatory but does not exclude that other reductions between mathematical theories can be.

Finally, theorists of style in mathematics and science have emphasized the importance of explanatory arguments for characterizing style. See Mancosu 2017 for an overview.

## 9. Conclusion

The last two decades have witnessed a significant increase of attention to mathematical explanation, both in science and mathematics. This has led to novel joint work between philosophers of science and philosophers of mathematics. While much has been achieved, we need more detailed case studies in order to understand better the variety of explanatory uses of mathematics in empirical contexts. But already at this stage, the philosophical pay-offs are coming from at least three different directions.

First, we have a better understanding of the applicability of mathematics to the world. Indeed, understanding the ‘unreasonable effectiveness’ of mathematics in discovering and accounting for the laws of the physical world (Wigner 1967, Steiner 1998 and 2005, Pincock 2012, Bangu 2012) can only be resolved if we understand how mathematics helps in scientific explanation. Second, the study of mathematical explanations of scientific facts is extensively being used as a test for theories of scientific explanation, in particular those that assume that explanation in natural science is causal explanation. Third, while the debate is still at a standstill, philosophical benefits have also emerged in the metaphysical arena by improved exploitation of various forms of the indispensability argument. Whether any such argument is going to be successful remains to be seen but the discussion is yielding philosophical benefits in forcing, for instance, the nominalist to take a stand on how he can account for the explanatoriness of mathematics in the empirical sciences. In addition, mathematical explanation plays a role in theorizing about mathematical coincidences (Lange 2010b, Baker 2009c), an interesting area of metaphysical investigation that had already been developed in the context of causal phenomena (see Owens 1992). One should also expect future developments emerging from the interaction of the analysis of grounding and mathematical explanation.

Also in the case of mathematical explanation of mathematical facts, we need to carefully analyze more case studies in order to get a better grasp of the varieties of mathematical explanations. The philosophical pay-offs of the work on mathematical explanation are coming from the following areas. First, mathematical explanation are being used to test models of scientific explanation. Theories of scientific explanations aim at capturing ‘scientific’ explanations in any area of knowledge, not just explanations in the natural sciences. If they cannot accommodate mathematical explanations, this will show important limitations of the theories in question. On the other hand, if no such theory will be able to encompass mathematical explanations and explanations in natural science under a single model, this might indicate important differences between science and mathematics. Secondly, accounting for mathematical explanations of scientific facts might be related in interesting ways to an account of mathematical explanations of mathematical facts. Third, ‘explanatoriness’ is only one virtue among those that an epistemology of mathematics that does not limit itself to traditional debates about justifying axioms can fruitfully investigate. Indeed, it is clear that ‘explanation’ is closely connected to other notions such as ‘generality’, ‘visualizability’, ‘mathematical understanding’, ‘purity of methods’, ‘conceptual fruitfulness’, ‘depth’ etc. The epistemological analysis of these important notions informing mathematical practice, and the connection among them, has only recently been taken up in earnest (for recent collection in this direction see the volumes Mancosu & others 2005 and Mancosu 2008a). In conclusion, let me also mention that the topic of mathematical explanation has important connections to issues of concern to historians of mathematics and mathematics education (see Hanna, Jahnke, and Pulte 2010 for a recent volume).

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### Acknowledgments

While this paper was originally written for the Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy, in some cases I have used verbatim passages from my previous publications (especially 2008b). Many thanks to Justin Bledin, Fabrizio Cariani, and Chris Pincock for their help with previous versions of this essay. This version has benefited from generous comments by Chris Pincock, Alexander Reutlinger, and Mark Colyvan.