Feminist Perspectives on Class and Work
A good place to situate the start of theoretical debates about women, class and work is in the intersection with Marxism and feminism. Such debates were shaped not only by academic inquiries but as questions about the relation between women's oppression and liberation and the class politics of the left, trade union and feminist movements in the late 19th and 20th centuries, particularly in the U.S., Britain and Europe. It will also be necessary to consider various philosophical approaches to the concept of work, the way that women's work and household activities are subsumed or not under this category, how the specific features of this work may or may not connect to different “ways of knowing” and different approaches to ethics, and the debate between essentialist and social constructionist approaches to differences between the sexes as a base for the sexual division of labor in most known human societies.
The relation of women as a social group to the analysis of economic class has spurred political debates within both Marxist and feminist circles as to whether women's movements challenging male domination can assume a common set of women's interests across race, ethnicity, and class. If there are no such interests, on what can a viable women's movement be based, and how can it evade promoting primarily the interests of white middle class and wealthy women? To the extent to which women do organize themselves as a political group cutting across traditional class lines, under what conditions are they a conservative influence as opposed to a progressive force for social change? If poor and working class women's issues are different than middle and upper class women's issues, how can middle class women's movements be trusted to address them? In addition to these questions, there is a set of issues related to cross-cultural comparative studies of women, work and relative power in different societies, as well as analyses of how women's work is connected to processes of globalization.
Considerable research in the past 30 years has been devoted to women and work in the context of shifting divisions of labor globally (Ehrenreich and Hochschild 2004). Some of this feminist work proceeds from the development perspectives promoted by the UN and other policy making institutions (Chen et al 2005), while other research takes a more critical view (Beneria 2003; Pyle and Ward 2007). Many studies address changes in the gender division of labor within specific national economies (Freeman 1999; George 2005; Rofel; Sangster 1995) while others consider the impact of transnational migration on women's class position (Pratt 2004; Romero 1992; Stephen 2007) and women's opportunities for cross-class solidarity and grassroots-based organizing (Mohanty 2003). More recent feminist research has addressed the restructuring of work and its impact on women and gender culture as an effect of neo-liberal economic adjustments (Adkins 2002; Enloe 2004; Federicci 2008; McRobbie 2002; Skeggs 2003).
- 1. Marxism, Work, and Human Nature
- 2. Marxist-Feminist Analyses
- 3. First Wave Feminist Analyses of Women and Work
- 4. Second Wave Feminist Analyses of Housework
- 5. The Public/Private Split and Its Implications
- 6. Psychological Theories of Women and Work
- 7. Ethical Theories of Women's Caring Work
- 8. Modernist vs. Postmodernist Feminist Theory
- 9. Race, Class, and Intersectional Feminist Analyses
- Academic Tools
- Other Internet Resources
- Related Entries
Marxism as a philosophy of human nature stresses the centrality of work in the creation of human nature itself and human self-understanding (see the entry on Marxism). Both the changing historical relations between human work and nature, and the relations of humans to each other in the production and distribution of goods to meet material needs construct human nature differently in different historical periods: nomadic humans are different than agrarian or industrial humans. Marxism as a philosophy of history and social change highlights the social relations of work in different economic modes of production in its analysis of social inequalities and exploitation, including relations of domination such as racism and sexism. (Marx 1844, 1950, 1906-9; Marx and Engels 1848, 1850; Engels 1942). Within capitalism, the system they most analyzed, the logic of profit drives the bourgeois class into developing the productive forces of land, labor and capital by expanding markets, turning land into a commodity and forcing the working classes from feudal and independent agrarian production into wage labor. Marx and Engels argue that turning all labor into a commodity to be bought and sold not only alienates workers by taking the power of production away from them, it also collectivizes workers into factories and mass assembly lines. This provides the opportunity for workers to unite against the capitalists and to demand the collectivization of property, i.e., socialism, or communism.
According to Engels's famous analysis of women's situation in the history of different economic modes production in The Origin of the Family, Private Property and the State (1942), women are originally equal to, if not more powerful than, men in communal forms of production with matrilineal family organizations. Women lose power when private property comes into existence as a mode of production. Men's control of private property, and the ability thereby to generate a surplus, changes the family form to a patriarchal one where women, and often slaves,  become the property of the father and husband.
The rise of capitalism, in separating the family household from commodity production, further solidifies this control of men over women in the family when the latter become economic dependents of the former in the male breadwinner-female housewife nuclear family form. Importantly, capitalism also creates the possibility of women's liberation from family-based patriarchy by creating possibilities for women to work in wage labor and become economically independent of husbands and fathers. Engels stresses, however, that because of the problem of unpaid housework, a private task allocated to women in the sexual division of labor of capitalism, full women's liberation can only be achieved with the development of socialism and the socialization of housework and childrearing in social services provided by the state. For this reason, most contemporary Marxists have argued that women's liberation requires feminists to join the working class struggle against capitalism (Cliff 1984).
Many Marxist-feminists thinkers, prominent among them sociologists and anthropologists, have done cross-cultural and historical studies of earlier forms of kinship and economy and the role of the sexual or gender division of labor in supporting or undermining women's social power (cf. Reed 1973, Leacock 1972, Rosaldo and Lamphere 1974). They have also attempted to assess the world economic development of capitalism as a contradictory force for the liberation of women (Federici 2004; Mies 1986; Saffioti 1978) and to argue that universal women's liberation requires attention to the worse off: poor women workers in poor post-colonial countries (Sen & Grown 1987). Other feminist anthropologists have argued that other variables in addition to women's role in production are key to understanding women's social status and power (Sanday 1981; Leghorn and Parker 1981). Yet other feminist economic historians have done historical studies of the ways that race, class and ethnicity have situated women differently in relation to production, for example in the history of the United States (Davis 1983; Amott and Matthaei 1991). Finally some Marxist-feminists have argued that women's work in biological and social reproduction is a necessary element of all modes of production and one often ignored by Marxist economists (Benston 1969; Hennessy 2003; Vogel 1995).
Those feminist analyses which have highlighted the role of women's work in the social construction of gender and the perpetuation of male dominance have been termed liberal, radical, Marxist, and socialist feminism by such influential categorizers as Jaggar and Rothenberg [Struhl] (1978), Tong (2000), Barrett (1980), Jaggar (1983) and Walby (1990). However, the pigeonhole categories of liberal, radical, Marxist, or socialist categories apply poorly to both to first wave women's movement feminist predecessors and contemporary deconstructionist, post-structuralist and post-colonialist perspectives.
A number of first wave feminists write about work and class as key issues for women's liberation, such as socialist-feminist Charlotte Perkins Gilman, heavily influenced by Darwinism and 19th century utopian modernism (Gilman 1898, 1910, 1979), anarchist Emma Goldman (1969), and existentialist, radical feminist and Marxist of sorts Simone de Beauvoir (1952). This is because the debates that arose around the place of the women's movement in class politics were different in the early and mid-twentieth century than they were in the 1960s when many feminist theorists were trying to define themselves independently of the left anti-Vietnam war and civil rights movements of the time.
The debate about the economic and social function of housework and its relation to women's oppression is an old one that has been a feature of both the first and second wave women's movements in the US, Britain and Europe. In both eras, the underlying issue is how to handle the public/private split of capitalist societies in which women's reproductive functions have either limited their work to the home or created a “second shift” problem of unpaid housework and childcare as well as waged work. In the first wave, located as it was in the Victorian period where the dominant ideology for middle and upper class women was purity, piety and domesticity (also called the “cult of true womanhood”), the debate centered on whether to keep housework in the private sphere yet make it more scientific and efficient (Beecher 1841; Richards 1915 ), or whether to “socialize” it by bringing it into the public sphere, as socialist Charlotte Perkins Gilman advocated (1898).
In the US, the “public housekeeping” aspect of the Progressive movement of the 1890s through early 1900s advocated that women bring the positive values associated with motherhood into the public sphere — by obtaining the vote, cleaning out corruption in politics, creating settlement houses to educate and support immigrants, and forming the women's peace movement, etc. (cf. Jane Addams 1914). Disagreements about whether to downplay or valorize the distinctive function and skills in motherhood as work for which women are naturally superior, or to see motherhood as restricting women's chances for economic independence and equality with men in the public sphere, were also evident in debates between Ellen Keys (1909, 1914) and Gilman. Keys represented the difference side, that women are superior humans because of mothering; while Gilman and Goldman took the equality side of the debate, that is, that, women are restricted, and made socially unequal to men, by unpaid housework and mothering.
In the second wave movement, theorists can be grouped by their theory of how housework oppresses women. Typically, liberal feminists critique housework because it is unpaid. This makes women dependent on men and devalued, since their work is outside the meaningful sphere of public economic production (Friedan 1963). Marxist feminist theorists see this as part of the problem, but some go further to maintain that housework is part of a household feudal mode of production of goods for use that persists under capitalism and gives men feudal powers over women's work (Benston 1969, Fox 1980). Other Marxist feminists argue that women's housework is part of the social reproduction of capitalism (Federici 1975, 2004; Malos 1975; Vogel 1995). That the necessary work of reproducing the working class is unpaid allows more profits to capitalists. It is the sexual division of labor in productive and reproductive work that makes woman unequal to men and allows capitalists to exploit women's unpaid labor. Some even make this analysis the basis for a demand for wages for housework (Dalla Costa 1974; Federici 1975). More recently, Federici has done an analysis of the transition to capitalism in Europe. She argues that it was the emerging capitalist class need to control working class reproduction, to eliminate working class women's control over biological reproduction, and to assure their unpaid reproductive work in the home by restricting abortions, that fueled the campaign against witches during this period (Federici 2004).
One of the philosophical problems raised by the housework debate is how to draw the line between work and play or leisure activity when the activity is not paid: is a mother playing with her baby working or engaged in play? If the former, then her hours in such activity may be compared with those of her husband or partner to see if there is an exploitation relation present, for example, if his total hours of productive and reproductive work for the family are less than hers (cf. Delphy 1984). But to the extent that childrearing counts as leisure activity, as play, as activity held to be intrinsically valuable (Ferguson 2004), no exploitation is involved. Perhaps childrearing and other caring activity is both work and play, but only that portion which is necessary for the psychological growth of the child and the worker(s) counts as work. If so, who determines when that line is crossed? Since non-market activity does not have a clear criterion to distinguish work from non-work, nor necessary from non-necessary social labor, an arbitrary element seems to creep in that makes standards of fairness difficult to apply to gendered household bargains between men and women dividing up waged and non-waged work. (Barrett 1980).
One solution to this problem is simply to take all household activity that could also be done by waged labor (nannies, domestic servants, gardeners, chauffeurs, etc.) as work and to figure its comparable worth by the waged labor necessary to replace it (Folbre 1982, 1983). Another is to reject altogether the attempts to base women's oppression on social relations of work, on the grounds that such theories are overly generalizing and ignore the discrete meanings that kinship activities have for women in different contexts (Nicholson 1991; Fraser and Nicholson 1991; Marchand 1995). Or, one can argue that although the line between work and leisure changes historically, those doing the activity should have the decisive say as to whether their activity counts as work, i.e., labor necessary to promote human welfare. The existence of second wave women's movements critiques of the “second shift” of unpaid household activity indicates that a growing number of women see most of it as work, not play (cf. Hochchild 1989). Finally, one can argue that since the human care involved in taking care of children and elders creates a public good, it should clearly be characterized as work, and those who are caretakers, primarily women, should be fairly compensated for it by society or the state (Ferguson and Folbre 2000: Folbre 2000, Ferguson 2004).
Liberal, Marxist and radical feminists have all characterized women as doubly alienated in capitalism because of the public/private split that relegates their work as mothers and houseworkers to the home, and psychologically denies them full personhood, citizenship and human rights (Foreman 1974, Okin 1989, Pateman 1988, Goldman 1969). Noting that women workers on average only have about 70% of the average salary of men in the contemporary U.S., feminists have claimed this is because women's work, tied stereotypically to housework and hence thought unskilled is undervalued, whether it is cleaning or rote service work, or nurturing work thought to be connected to natural maternal motivations and aptitudes. Hence some feminists have organized in campaigns for “comparable worth” to raise women's wages to the same as men's wages involving comparable skills (Brenner 2000; cf. also articles in Hansen and Philipson eds. 1990).
Many radical feminists maintain that women's work is part of a separate patriarchal mode of reproduction that underlies all economic systems of production and in which men exploit women's reproductive labor (Delphy 1984; O'Brien 1981; Leghorn and Parker 1981; Rich 1980; Mies 1986). Smith (1974), O'Brien (1981), Hartsock (1983 a,b), Haraway (1985) and Harding (1986) pioneered in combining this radical feminist assumption with a perspectival Marxist theory of knowledge to argue that one's relation to the work of production and reproduction gave each gender and each social class a different way of knowing the social totality. Women's work, they argued, ties them to nature and human needs in a different way than men's work does, which creates the possibility of a less alienated and more comprehensive understanding of the workings of the social totality. Collins argues further that the racial division of labor, institutional racism and different family structures put African American women in yet a different epistemic relation to society than white and other women (1990, 2000). Writing in a post-modernist re-articulation of this feminist standpoint theory, Donna Haraway argues that the breakdown of the nature/culture distinction because of scientific technology and its alteration of the human body makes us into “cyborgs.” Hence our perspectives are so intersectional that they cannot be unified simply by a common relation to work. What is required for a feminist politics is not a situated identity politics, whether of gender and/or race and/or class, but an affinity politics based on alliances and coalitions that combine epistemic perspectives (Haraway 1985).
Like these radical feminists, some socialist-feminists have tried to develop a “dual systems” theory (cf. Young 1981). This involves theorizing a separate system of work relations that organizes and directs human sexuality, nurturance, affection and biological reproduction. Rather than seeing this as an unchanging universal base for patriarchy, however, they have argued that this system, thought of as the “sex/gender system” (Rubin 1975; Hartmann 1978, 1981a,b), or as “sex/affective production” (Ferguson 1989, 1991; Ferguson and Folbre 1981) has different historical modes, just as Marx argued that economies do. Rubin argues that sex/gender systems have been based in different kinship arrangements, most of which have supported the exchange of women by men in marriage, and hence have supported male domination and compulsory heterosexuality. She is hopeful that since capitalism shifted the organization of the economy from kinship to commodity production, the power of fathers and husbands over daughters and wives, and the ability to enforce heterosexuality, will continue to decline, and women's increasing ability to be economically independent will lead to women's liberation and equality with men.
With a different historical twist, Hartmann argues that a historical bargain was cemented between capitalist and working class male patriarchs to shore up patriarchal privileges that were being weakened by the entrance of women into wage labor in the 19th century by the creation of the “family wage” to allow men sufficient wages to support a non-wage-earning wife and children at home (1981a). While Ferguson and Folbre (1981) agree that there is no inevitable fit between capitalism and patriarchy, they argue that there are conflicts, and that the family wage bargain has broken down at present. Indeed, both Ferguson and Smart (1984) argue that welfare state capitalism and the persistent sexual division of wage labor in which work coded as women's is paid less than men's with less job security are ways that a “public patriarchy” has replaced different systems of family patriarchy that were operating in early and pre-capitalist societies. Walby (1990) has a similar analysis, but to her the connection between forms of capitalism and forms of patriarchy is more functional and less accidental than it appears to Ferguson and Smart. [It would be helpful to briefly explain how Walby sees it as functional. Added paragraph below:]
Walby argues that there are two different basic forms of patriarchy which emerge in response to the tensions between capitalist economies and patriarchal household economies: private and public patriarchy. Private patriarchy as a form is marked by excluding women from economic and political power while public patriarchy works by segregating women. There is a semi-automatic re-adjustment of the dual systems when the older private father patriarchy based on the patriarchal family is broken down due to the pressures of early industrial capitalism. The family wage and women's second class citizenship that marked that initial re-adjustment are then functionally replaced by a public form of patriarchy, the patriarchal welfare state, where women enter the wage labor force permanently but in segregated less well paid jobs. But Ferguson (1989,1991), Smart (1984) and Folbre (1994) suggest that although the patriarchal control of fathers and husbands over wife and children as economic assets has been diminished in advanced capitalism, there is always a dialectical and contradictory tension between patriarchy and capitalism in which both advances and retreats for women's equality as citizens and in work relations are constantly occurring in the new form of public patriarchy. Thus, the new “marriage” of patriarchal capitalism operates to relegate women to unpaid or lesser paid caring labor, whether in the household or in wage labor, thus keeping women by and large unequal to men. This is especially notable in the rise of poor single-mother-headed families. However, as it forces more and more women into wage labor, women are given opportunities for some independence from men and the possibility to challenge male dominance and sex segregation in all spheres of social life. Examples are the rise of the first and second wave women's movements and consequent gains in civil rights for women.
The work of feminist sociologist Dorothy Smith (1989) has been a notable intervention into the public-private split by bringing into view the institutions and power regimes that regulate the everyday world, their gender subtext, and basis in a gendered division of labor.
The socialist-feminist idea that there are two interlocking systems that structure gender and the economy, and thus are jointly responsible for male domination, has been developed in a psychological direction by the psychoanalytic school of feminist theorists. Particularly relevant to the question of women and work are the theories of Mitchell (1972, 1974), Kuhn and Wolpe (1978), Chodorow (1978, 1979, 1982) and Ruddick (1989). Mothering, or, taking care of babies and small children, as a type of work done overwhelmingly by women, socializes women and men to have different identities, personalities and skills. In her first work (1972), Mitchell argues that women's different relations to productive work, reproduction, socialization of children and sexuality in patriarchy give her lesser economic and psychological power in relation to men. In a Freudian vein, Mitchell later argues (1974) that women learn that they are not full symbolic subjects because compulsory heterosexuality and the incest taboo bar them from meeting either the desire of their mother or any other woman. Chodorow, also reading Freud from a feminist perspective, suggests that women's predominance in mothering work is the basis for the learned gender distinction between women and men. The sexual division of infant care gives boys, who must learn their masculine identity by separating from their mother and the feminine, a motive for deprecating, as well as dominating, women. Ruddick from a more Aristotelian perspective suggests that it is the skills and virtues required in the practice of mothering work which not only socially construct feminine gender differently from men's, but could ground an alternative vision for peace and resolving human conflicts, if a peace movement were led by women.
Ferguson argues that the “sex/affective” work of mothering and wifely nurturing is exploitative of women: women give more nurturance and satisfaction (including sexual satisfaction) to men and children than they receive, and do much more of the work of providing these important human goods (cf. also Bartky 1990). The gendered division of labor has both economic and psychological consequences, since women's caring labor creates women less capable of or motivated to separate from others, and hence less likely to protest such gender exploitation (Ferguson 1989, 1991). Folbre argues by contrast that it is only because women's bargaining power is less than men's because of the power relations involved in the gender division of labor and property that women acquiesce to such inequalities (Folbre 1982). Ferguson argues that gendered exploitation in a system of meeting human needs suggests that women can be seen as a “sex class” (or gender class) which cuts across economic class lines (1979, 1989, 1991). This line of thought is also developed by Christine Delphy (1984), Monique Wittig (1980) and Luce Irigaray (1975).
On the other side of the debate, Brenner (2000) argues that women are not uniformly exploited by men across economic class lines: indeed, for working class women their unpaid work as housewives serves the working class as a whole, because the whole class benefits when its daily and future reproduction needs are met by women's nurturing and childcare work. They argue further that middle and upper class women's economic privileges will inevitably lead them to betray working class women in any cross-class alliance that is not explicitly anti-capitalist. Hochchild (2000) and hooks (2000) point out that career women tend to pay working class women to do the second shift work in the home so they can avoid that extra work, and they have an interest in keeping such wages, e.g., for house cleaning and nannies, as low as possible to keep the surplus for themselves. Kollias (1981) argues further that working class women are in a stronger political position to work effectively for women's liberation than middle class women, while McKenny (1981) argues that professional women have to overcome myths of professionalism that keep them feeling superior to working class women and hence unable to learn from or work with them for social change.
Several authors have explored the ethical implications of the sexual division of labor in which it is primarily women who do caring labor. Nancy Fraser (1997) and Susan Moller Okin (1989) formulate ethical arguments to maintain that a just model of society would have to re-structure work relations so that the unpaid and underpaid caring labor now done primarily by women would be given a status equivalent to (other) wage labor by various means. In her council socialist vision, Ferguson (1989, 1991) argues that an ideal society would require both women and men to do the hitherto private unpaid work of caring or “sex/affective labor.” For example, such work would be shared by men, either in the family and/or provided by the state where appropriate (as for elders and children's childcare), and compensated fairly by family allowances (for those, women or men, doing the major share of housework), and by higher pay for caring wage work (such as daycare workers, nurses, and teachers).
Carol Gilligan (1982) claims that women and girls tend to use a different form of ethical reasoning — she terms this the “ethics of care” — than men and boys who use an ethics of justice. Some have argued that this different ethical approach is due to women's caring sensibilities that have been developed by the sexual division of labor (Ruddick 1989). Interestingly, the debate between feminist theorists of justice, e.g., Fraser and Okin, and ethics of care feminists such as Gilligan and Ruddick, is less about substance than a meta-ethical disbute as to whether ethics should concern principles or judgments in particular cases. All of these theorists seem to have ideal visions of society which dovetail: all would support the elimination of the sexual division of labor so that both men and women could become equally sensitized to particular others through caring work.
Useful anthologies of the first stage of second wave socialist feminist writings which include discussions of women, class and work from psychological as well as sociological and economic perspectives are Eisenstein (1979), Hansen and Philipson (1990), Hennessy and Ingraham (1997), and Holmstrom (2002). Jaggar (1983) wrote perhaps the first philosophy text explaining the categories of liberal, radical, Marxist and socialist-feminist thought and defending a socialist-feminist theory of male domination based on the notion of women's alienated labor. Others such as Jaggar and Rothenberg (1978), Tuana and Tong (1995) and Herrmann and Stewart (1993) include classic socialist feminist analyses in their collections, inviting comparisons of the authors to others grouped under the categories of liberal, radical, psychoanalytic, Marxist, postmodern, postcolonial and multicultural feminisms.
Various post-modern critiques of these earlier feminist schools of thought such as post-colonialism as well as deconstruction and post-structuralism challenge the over-generalizations and economic reductionism of many of those constructing feminist theories that fall under the early categories of liberal, radical, Marxist or socialist- feminism (cf. Nicholson 1991; Fraser and Nicholson 1991; hooks 1984, 2000; Anzaldua and Moraga, eds. 1981). Others argue that part of the problem is the master narratives of liberalism or Marxism, the first of which sees all domination relations due to traditional hierarchies and undermined by capitalism, thus ignoring the independent effectivity of racism (Josephs 1981); and the second of which ties all domination relations to the structure of contemporary capitalism and ignores the non-capitalist economics contexts in which many women work, even within so-called capitalist economies, such as housework and voluntary community work (Gibson-Graham 1996).
In spite of the “pomo” critiques, there are some powerful thinkers within this tendency who have not completely rejected a more general starting point of analysis based on women, class and work. For example, Spivak (1988), Mohanty (1997), Carby (1997), and Hennessy (1993, 2000) are creating and re-articulating forms of Marxist and socialist-feminism less susceptible to charges of over-generalization and reductionism, and more compatible with close contextual analysis of the power relations of gender and class as they relate to work. They can be grouped loosely with a tendency called materialist feminism that incorporates some of the methods of deconstruction and post-structuralism (Hennessy 1993; Landry and MacLean 1993; and the online paper by Ferguson in the Other Internet Resources section).
Many in the contemporary feminist theory debate are interested in developing concrete “intersectional” or “integrative feminist” analyses of particular issues which try to give equal weight to gender, race, class and sexuality in a global context without defining themselves by the categories, such as liberal, radical or materialist, of the earlier feminist debate categories (cf. work by Davis 1983; Brewer 1995; Crenshaw 1997; Stanlie and James 1997; Anzaldua; hooks 1984, 2000). Nonetheless strong emphasis on issues of race and ethnicity can be found in their work on women, class and work. For example, Brewer shows that white and African-American working class women are divided by race in the workforce, and that even changes in the occupational structure historically tend to maintain this racial division of labor. Hooks argues that women of color and some radical feminists were more sensitive to class and race issues than those, primarily white, feminists whom she labels “reformist feminists” (hooks 2000).
Presupposed in the general theoretical debates concerning the relations between gender, social and economic class, and work are usually definitions of each of these categories that some thinkers would argue are problematic. For example, Tokarczyk and Fay have an excellent anthology on working class women in the academy (1993) in which various contributors discuss the ambiguous positions in which they find themselves by coming from poor family backgrounds and becoming academics. One problem is whether they are still members of the working class in so doing, and if not, whether they are betraying their families of origin by a rise to middle class status. Another is, whether they have the same status in the academy, as workers, thinkers and women, as those men or women whose families of origin were middle class or above. Rita Mae Brown wrote an early article on this, arguing that education and academic status did not automatically change a working class woman's identity, which is based not just on one's relation to production, but one's behavior, basic assumptions about life, and experiences in childhood (Brown 1974). Tokarczyk and Fay acknowledge that the definition of “class” is vague in the U.S. Rather than provide a standard philosophical definition in terms of necessary and sufficient conditions for membership in the working class, they provide a cluster of characteristics and examples of jobs, such as physically demanding, repetitive and dangerous jobs, jobs that lack autonomy and are generally paid badly. Examples of working class jobs they give are cleaning women, waitresses, lumberjacks, janitors and police officers. They then define their term “working class women academics” to include women whose parents had jobs such as these and are in the first generation in their family to attend college (Tokarczyk and Fay: 5). They challenge those that would argue that family origin can be overcome by the present position one has in the social division of labor: simply performing a professional job and earning a salary does not eradicate the class identity formed in one's “family class” (cf. Ferguson 1979).
More recent work in socio-legal studies also has begun to question the limits of intersectional analysis (Grabham et al. 2008).
To theorize the problematic relation of women to social class, Ferguson (1979, 1989, 1991) argues that there are at least three different variables — an individual's work, family of origin, and present household economic unit — which relate an individual to a specific socio-economic class. For example, a woman may work on two levels: as a day care worker (working class), but also as a member of a household where she does the housework and mothering/child care, while her husband is a wealthy contractor (petit bourgeois, small capitalist class). If in addition her family of origin is professional middle class (because, say, her parents were college educated academics), the woman may be seen and see herself as either working class or middle class, depending on whether she and others emphasize her present relations of wage work (her individual economic class, which in this case is working class), her household income (middle class) or her family of origin (middle class).
Sylvia Walby deals with this ambiguity of economic class as applying to women as unpaid houseworkers by claiming against Delphy (1984) that the relevant economic sex classes are those who are housewives vs. those who are husbands benefiting from such work, not those of all women and men, whether or not they do or receive housework services (Walby 1990). Ferguson, however, sides with Delphy in putting all women into “sex class”, since all women, since trained into the gender roles of patriarchal wife and motherhood, are potentially those whose unpaid housework can be so exploited. But seeing herself as a member of a fourth class category, “sex class,” and hence, in a patriarchal capitalist system, seeing herself exploited as a woman worker in her wage work and unpaid second shift housework,  is thus not a given but an achieved social identity. Such an identity is usually formed through political organizing and coalitions with other women at her place of employment, in her home and her community. In this sense the concept of sex class is exactly analogous to the concept of a feminist epistemological standpoint: not a given identity or perspective, but one that is achievable under the right conditions.
Realizing the importance of this disjuncture between economic class and sex class for women, Maxine Molyneux (1984) argues in a often cited article that there are no “women's interests” in the abstract that can unify women in political struggle. Instead, she theorizes that women have both “practical gender interests” and “strategic gender interests.” Practical gender interests are those that women develop because of the sexual division of labor, which makes them responsible for the nurturant work of sustaining the physical and psychological well-being of children, partners and relatives through caring labor. Such practical gender interests, because they tie a woman's conception of her own interests as a woman to those of her family, support women's popular movements for food, water, child and health care, even defense against state violence, which ally them with the economic class interests of their family. Strategic gender interests, on the contrary, may ally women across otherwise divided economic class interests, since they are those, like rights against physical male violence and reproductive rights, which women have as a sex class to eliminate male domination.
Molyneux used her distinctions between practical and strategic gender interests to distinguish between the popular women's movement in Nicaragua based on demands for economic justice for workers and farmers against the owning classes, demands such as education, health and maternity care, clean water, food and housing, and the feminist movement which emphasized the fight for legal abortion, fathers' obligation to pay child support to single mothers, and rights against rape and domestic violence. She and others have used this distinction between practical and strategic gender interests to characterize the tension between popular women's movements and feminist movements in Latin America (Molyneux 2001; Alvarez 1998; Foweraker 1998).
A similar distinction between different types of women's interests was developed further as a critique of interest group paradigms of politics by Anna Jónasdóttir (1988, 1994). Jónasdóttir argues that women have a common formal interest in votes for women, women's political caucuses, gender parity demands, and other mechanisms which allow women a way to develop a collective political voice, even though their content interests, that is, their specific needs and priorities, may vary by race and economic class, among others. Her distinctions, and those of Molyneux, have been changed slightly — practical vs. strategic gender needs, rather than interests — to compare and contrast different paradigms of economic development by World Bank feminist theorist Carolyn Moser (1993). Most recently the Jónasdóttir distinctions have been used by Mohanty (1997) to defend and maintain, in spite of postmodernists' emphasis on intersectional differences, that commonalities in women's gendered work can create a cross-class base for demanding a collective political voice for women: a transnational feminism which creates a demand for women's political representation, developing the platform of women's human rights as women and as workers. Nonetheless, the tension between women's economic class-based interests or needs and their visionary/strategic gender interests or needs is still always present, and must therefore always be negotiated concretely by popular movements for social justice involving women's issues.
Another approach to the problematic nature of socio-economic class as it relates to women are empirical studies which show how class distinctions are still important for women in their daily lives as a way to compare and contrast themselves with other women and men, even if they do not use the concepts of “working class,” “professional class” or “capitalist class”. Many have pointed out that the concept of class itself is mystified in the U.S. context, but that nonetheless class distinctions still operate because of different structural economic constraints, which act on some differently from others. The Ehrenreichs (1979), in a classic article, argue that this mystification is due to the emergence of a professional-managerial class that has some interests in common with the capitalist class and some with the working class. Whatever its causes, there are empirical studies which show that class distinctions still operate between women, albeit in an indirect way. Barbara Ehrenreich (2001), by adopting the material life conditions of a poor woman, did an empirical study of the lives of women working for minimum wages and found their issues to be quite different from and ignored by middle and upper-class women. Diane Reay (2004) does an empirical study of women from manual labor family backgrounds and their relation to the schooling of their children, and discovers that they use a discourse that acknowledges class differences of educational access and career possibilities, even though it does not specifically define these by class per se. Similarly, Julie Bettie (2000) does an impressive discourse analysis of the way that Latina high school students create their own class distinctions through concepts such as “chicas,” “cholas” and “trash” to refer to themselves and their peers. These categories pick out girls as having middle class, working class or poor aspirations by performance indicators such as dress, speech, territorial hang-outs and school achievement, while never mentioning “class” by name. Women's experiences of growing up working class are presented in the anthology edited by Tea (2003).
Theoretical and empirical debates about the relation of women to class and work, and the implications of these relations for theories of male domination and women's oppression as well as for other systems of social domination, continue to be important sources of theories and investigations of gender identities, roles and powers in the field of women and gender studies, as well as in history, sociology, anthropology and economics. They also have important implications for epistemology, metaphysics and political theory in the discipline of philosophy, and consequently other disciplines in humanities and the social sciences.
- Addams, Jane, 1914. “Women and Public Housekeeping”, In Women and Public Life, Ed. James P. Lichtenberger, Annuals of the American Academy of Political and Social Science, v. 56,
- Alvarez, Sonia, 1998. “Latin American Feminisms ‘Go Global’: Trends of the 1990s and Challenges for the New Milennium”, in S. Alvarez, E. Dagnin and A. Escobar eds. Cultures of Politics/Politics of Cultures: Revisioning Latin American Social Movements, Boulder Co: Westview: 93-115.
- Amott, Teresa and Julie Matthaei, 1991. Race, Gender and Work: A Multicultural Economic History of Women in the United States, Boston: South End Press.
- Anzaldua, Gloria, 1999. Borderlands/La Frontera, San Francisco: Aunt Lute Press.
- Anzaldua, Gloria and Cherr'e Moraga (eds.), 1981. This Bridge Called My Back: Writings by Radical Women of Color, Watertown MA: Persephone Press.
- Barrett, Michele, 1980. Women's Oppression Today: Problems in Marxist Feminist Analysis, London: Verso.
- Bartky, Sandra, 1990. Femininity and Domination: Studies in the Phenomenology of Oppression, New York: Routledge.
- Beauvoir, Simone De, 1978. The Second Sex, tr. & ed. by. HM Parshley. New York: Knopf.
- Beecher, Catherine,  1970. A Treatise on Domestic Economy, New York: Source Book Press.
- Beneria, Lourdes, 2003. Gender, Development, and Globalization: Economics As If All People Mattered, London: Routledge.
- Benston, Margaret, 1969. “The Political Economy of Women's Liberation”, Monthly Review, v. 21, n.4 (September 1969).
- Bettie, Julie, 2000. “Women without Class: Chicas, Cholas, Trash and the Presence/Absence of Class Identity”, Signs: Journal of Women in Culture and Society, v.26, n.1: 1-35.
- Brenner, Johanna, 2000. Women and the Politics of Class, New York: Monthly Review.
- Brewer, Rose, 1993.“Theorizing Race, Class and Gender”, in Stanlie James and Abena Busia, eds. Theorizing Black Feminisms: The Visionary Pragmatism of Black WomenNew York: Routledge: 13-30.
- Brown, Rita Mae, 1974. “The Last Straw”, in Bunch and Myron 1974, op. cit., 13-23.
- Bunch, Charlotte and Nancy Myron (eds.), 1974. Class and Feminism, Baltimore: Diana Press.
- Carby, Hazel, 1997. “White Woman Listen!!” in Hennessy and Ingraham (eds.), op. cit., 110-128.
- Chen, Martha, et al., 2005. Progress of the World's Women: Women, Work, and Poverty, New York: UNIFEM.
- Chodorow, Nancy, 1978. The Reproduction of Mothering, Berkeley: University of California.
- –––, 1979. “Mothering, Male Dominance, and Capitalism”, in Zillah Eisenstein, ed. 1979, Capitalist Patriarchy and the Case for Socialist Feminism, New York: Monthly Review Press: 83-106.
- –––, 1989. “Toward a Relational Individualism”, in Feminism and Psychoanalytic Theory (London: Polity Press): 154-162.
- Cliff, Tony, 1984. Class Struggle and Women's Liberation, London: Blackwell.
- Collins, Patricia Hill, 1990, 2000. Black Feminist Thought, 1st and 2nd editions. New York: Routledge.
- Crenshaw, Kimberlé, 1992. “Whose Story is it Anyway? Feminist and Anti-racist Appropriations of Anita Hill”, in Toni Morrison ed., Race-ing Justice, Engendering Power, New York: Pantheon: 402-41.
- Dalla Costa, Maria, 1974. The Power of Women and the Subversion of the Community, Bristol, England: Falling Wall Press.
- Davis, Angela, 1983. Women, Race, and Class, New York: Vintage Press.
- Delphy, Christine, 1984. Close to Home: A Materialist Analysis of Women's Oppression, Amherst MA: University of Massachusetts.
- DiQuinzio, Patrice, 1999. The Impossibility of Motherhood: Feminism, Individualism, and the Problem of Mothering, New York: Routledge.
- Ehrenreich, Barbara and John Ehrenreich, 1979. “The Professional-Managerial Class”, in Walker (ed.) 1979. op. cit., 5-49.
- Ehrenreich, Barbara and Arlie Hochschild (eds.), 2004. Global Women: Nannies, Maids, and Sex Workers in the New Economy, New York: Holt.
- –––, 2001. Nickled and Dimed: On (Not) Getting By in America, New York: Metropolitan Books.
- Eisenstein, Zillah (ed.), 1979. Capitalist Patriarchy and the Case for Socialist Feminism, New York: Monthly Review.
- Engels, Friedrich, 1972. The Origin of the Family, Private Property and the State, in the light of the researches of Lewis H. Morgan, New York: International Publishers 
- Enloe, Cynthia, 2004. The Curious Feminist: Searching for Women in the New Age of Empire, Berkeley: University of California Press.
- –––, 1975. “Wages Against Housework”, in Malos (ed.) 1975, op. cit., 187-194.
- Ferguson, Ann, 1979. “Women as a New Revolutionary Class in the US”, in Walker (ed.) 1979, op. cit., 279-309.
- –––, 1989. Blood at the Root: Motherhood, Sexuality and Male Domination, New York: Pandora/Unwin and Hyman.
- –––, 1991. Sexual Democracy: Women, Oppression and Revolution, Boulder CO: Westview Press.
- –––, 1996. “Sex and Work”, in Kai Nielson and Robert Ware, eds. Exploitation, New York: Humanities Press: 272-280.
- –––, 1998. “Feminism and Socialism”, in Alison Jaggar and Iris Young, eds. Blackwell's Companion to Feminist Philosophy, Oxford: Blackwell Ltd.: 520-529.
- –––, 2004. “A Feminist Analysis of the Care Crisis”, in Fina Birulés and Maria Isabel Peña Aguado. eds. La Passió per la Libertat/A Passion for Freedom, The Proceedings of the International Women's Philosophy Association (IAPh) conference, October 1-5, 2002. Barcelona, Spain: Universitat de Barcelona.
- Ferguson, Ann and Nancy Folbre, 1981. “The Unhappy Marriage of Capitalism and Patriarchy”, in Sargent (ed.) 1981, op. cit., 313-338.
- –––, 2000. “Women, Care and the Public Good: A Dialogue”, in Anatole Anton, Milton Fisk and Nancy Holmstrom, eds. Not for Sale: In Defense of Public Goods, Boulder CO: Westview Press: 95-108.
- Folbre, Nancy, 1982. “Exploitation Comes Home: A Critique of the Marxian Theory of Family Labor”, Cambridge Journal of Economics, v. 6 n.4: 317-29.
- –––, 1983. “Of Patriarchy Born: The Political Economy of Fertility Decisions”, Feminist Studies, v. 9 $2: 261-84.
- –––, 1987. “Patriarchy as a Mode of Production”, in Randy Albelda and C. Gunn, eds. New Directions in Political Economy: New York: M.E. Sharpe.
- –––, 1993. “Socialism: Feminist or Scientific?” In M. Ferber and Julie Nelson, eds. Beyond Economic Man, Chicago: University of Chicago Press.
- –––, 1994. Who Pays for the Kids? Gender and the Structures of Constraint, New York: Routledge.
- –––, 2000. The Invisible Heart: Economics and Family Values, New York: The New Press.
- Foreman, Ann, 1977. Femininity as Alienation: Women and the Family in Marxism and Psychoanalysis, London: Pluto.
- Foweraker, Joe, 1998. “Ten Theses on Women in the Political Life of Latin America”, in Victoria Rodriguez, ed. Women's Participation in Mexican Political Life, Boulder CO: Westview: 63-73.
- Fox, Bonnie (ed.), 1980. Hidden in the Household: Women's Domestic Labour under Capitalism, Toronto: The Women's Press.
- Fraser, Nancy and Linda Nicholson, 1991. “Social Criticism without Philosophy: An Encounter between Feminism and Postmodernism”, in Nicholson (ed.) 1991, op. cit., 19-38.
- Fraser, Nancy, 1997. Justice Interruptus: Critical Reflections on the “Post-Socialist” Condition, New York: Routledge.
- Freeman, Carla, 1999. High Tech and High Heels in the Global Economy: Women, Work, and Pink-Collar Identities in the Caribbean, Raleigh and Durham, NC: Duke University Press.
- Friedan, Betty, 1963. The Feminine Mystique, New York: Norton.
- George, Sheba, 2005. When Women Come First, Berkely, CA: University of California Press.
- Gibson-Graham, J.K., 1996. The End of Capitalism (as we knew it), Cambridge MA: Blackwell Publishers.
- Gilligan, Carol, 1982. In a Different Voice: Psychological Theory and Women's Development, Cambridge: Harvard University.
- Gilman, Charlotte Perkins, 1898. Women and Economics: A Study of the Economic Relation between Men and Women as a Factor in Social Evolution, Boston: Small, Mayard and Co.
- –––,  1910. The Home, Its Work and Influence, New York: Charlton Company
- –––, 1979. Herland, New York: Pantheon.
- Goldman, Emma. 1969. Anarchism and Other Essays, New York: Dover.
- Grabham, Emily, Davina Cooper, Jane Krishnadas, and Didi Herman (eds.), 2009. Intersectionality and Beyond, London: Routledge-Cavandish.
- Hansen, Karen V. and Ilene J. Philipson (eds.), 1990. Women, Class and the Feminist Imagination: A Socialist-Feminist Reader, Philadelphia: Temple University.
- Haraway, Donna, 1985. “A Manifesto for Cybourgs: Science, Technology and Socialist-Feminism in the 1980s”, Socialist Review, v.15 n.2 (Mar. Apr. 1985): 65-107.
- Harding, Sandra, 1986. The Science Question in Feminism, Ithaca: Cornell University.
- Hartmann, Heidi, 1979. “Capitalism, Patriarchy and Job Segregation by Sex”, in Eisenstein (ed.), op. cit., 206-247.
- –––, 1981a. “The Unhappy Marriage of Marxism and Feminism: Toward a More Progressive Union”, in Sargent (ed.) 1981, op. cit., 1-42.
- –––, 1981b. “The Family as the Locus of Gender, Class and Political Struggle: The Example of Housework”, Signs, v. 6 n.3: 366-394.
- Hartsock, Nancy, 1983a. “The Feminist Standpoint: Developing the Ground for a Specifically Feminist Historical Materialism”, in Sandra Harding and Merle Hintikka, eds. Discovering Reality: Feminist Perspectives in Epistemology, Metaphysics and the Philosophy of Science, Dordrecht, Holland: Reidel Publishers: 283-310.
- –––, 1983b. Money, Sex and Power, New York: Longman.
- Hayden, Dolores, 1981. The Grand Domestic Revolution: A History of Feminist Designs for American Homes, Neighborhoods and Cities, Cambridge MA: MIT Press.
- Hennessy, Rosemary, 2003. “Class”, in Mary Eagleton, ed. A Concise Companion to Feminist Theory, Malden, MA: Blackwell.
- –––, 1993. Materialist Feminism and the Politics of Discourse, New York: Routledge.
- –––, 2000. Profit and Pleasure: Sexual Identities in Late Capitalism, New York: Routledge.
- Hennessy, Rosemary and Chrys Ingraham (eds.), 1997. Materialist Feminism: A Reader in Class, Difference, and Women's Lives, New York: Routledge.
- Herrmann, Anne C. and Abigail J. Stewart (eds.), 1994. “Theorizing Feminism: Parallel Trends in the Humanities and Social Sciences”, Boulder: Westview Press.
- Hochschild, Arlie, 2000. “Global Care Chains and Emotional Surplus Value”, in Will Hutton and Anthony Giddens Global Capitalism, New York: The New Press: 130-146.
- –––, 1989. The Second Shift: Working Parents and the Revolution at Home, New York: Penguin.
- Holmstrom, Nancy (ed.), 2002. The Socialist Feminist Project: A Contemporary Reader in Theory and Politics, New York: Monthly Review.
- Hooks, Bell, 1984. Feminist Theory from Margin to Center, Boston: South End.
- –––, 2000. Where We Stand: Class Matters, New York: Routledge.
- Irigaray, Luce, 1985. This Sex Which is not One, tr. Catherine Porter. Ithaca NY: Cornell University: 23-33.
- Jaggar, Alison, 1983. Feminist Politics and Human Nature, Totowa NJ: Rowman and Allenheld.
- Jaggar, Alison and Paula Rothenberg [Struhl] (eds.), 1978. Feminist Frameworks: Alternative Theoretical Accounts of the Relations between Women and Men, New York: McGraw Hill.
- James, Stanlie and Abena Busia (eds.), 1993. Theorizing Black Feminisms: The Visionary Pragmatism of Black Women, New York: Routledge.
- Jónasdóttir, Anna, 1988. “On the Concept of Interest, Women's Interests and the Limitations of Interest Theory”, in Kathleen Jones and Anna Jónasdóttir. eds. The Political Interests of Gender, London: Sage.
- –––, 1994. Why Women Are Oppressed, Philadelphia: Temple University.
- Joseph, Gloria, 1981. “The Incompatible Menage à Trois: Marxism, Feminism and Racism”, in Sargent (ed.), op. cit., 91-108.
- Key, Ellen, 1909. The Century of the Child, New York: G.P. Putnam's Sons.
- –––, 1914. The Renaissance of Motherhood, New York: G.P. Putnam's Sons
- Kollias, Karen, 1975. “Class Realities: Create a New Power Base”, Quest: a Feminist Quarterly, v. 1 n.3 (Winter 1975), reprinted in Quest, eds. 1981. Building Feminist Theory: Essays from Quest, New York: Longmans: 125-138.
- Kuhn, Annette and AnnMarie Wolpe (eds.), 1978. Feminism and Materialism: Women and Modes of Production, London: Routledge and Kegan Paul Ltd.
- Landry, Donna and Gerald MacLean, 1993. Materialist Feminisms, Oxford: Blackwell Publishers.
- Leacock, Eleanor, 1972. “Introduction”, in Engels 1972.
- Leghorn, Lisa and Katherine Parker, 1981. Woman's Worth: Sexual Economics and the World of Women, London: Routledge and Kegan Paul.
- Lerner, Gerda, 1986. Women and History, New York: Oxford University Press.
- McKenney, Mary, 1981. “Class Attitudes and Professionalism”, in Quest 1981, 139-148.
- Malos, Ellen (ed.), 1975. The Politics of Housework, New York: The New Clarion Press.
- Marchand, Marianne, 1995. “Latin American Women Speak on Development: Are We Listening Yet?” In Marianne Marchand and Jane Parpart, eds. Feminism/Postmodernism/Development, New York: Routledge: 56-72.
- Marx, Karl, , Economic and Philosophical Manuscripts, In Lewis S. Feuer, ed. 1989. Basic Writings on Politics and Philosophy/Karl Marx, Friedrich Engels, New York: Anchor Books.
- –––, , 1970. Introduction to the Critique of Political Economy, Trans. S.W. Ryazanskaya, ed. Maurice Dobb. New York: International Publishers.
- –––, 1906-09. Capital: A Critique of Political Economy, vols. 1-3, Chicago: C.H. Kerr and Company.
- Marx, Karl and Friedrich Engels, 1848. Manifesto of the Communist Party; authorized English translation edited and annotated by Friedrich Engels, New York: International.
- –––,  1970. German Ideology, Part I. New York: International.
- McRobbie, Angela, 2002. Feminism and Youth Culture, 2nd edition. New York: Routledge.
- Mies, Maria, 1986. Patriarchy and Accumulation on a World Scale, London: Zed.
- Mitchell, Juliet, 1972. Women's Estate, New York: Random House.
- –––, 1974. Psychoanalysis and Feminism, New York: Pantheon.
- Mohanty, Chandra Talpade, 2003. Feminism Without Borders: Decolonizing Theory, Practicing Solidarity, Raleigh and Durham, NC: Duke University Press.
- –––, 1997. “Women Workers and Capitalist Scripts: Ideologies of Domination, Common Interests and the Politics of Solidarity”, in M. Jacqui Alexander and Chandra Talpade Mohanty, eds. Feminist Genealogies, Colonial Legacies, Democratic Futures, New York: Routledge: 3-29.
- Molyneux, Maxine, 1985. “Mobilization without Emancipation? Women's Interests, State and Revolution”, Feminist Studies, v. 11 n.2 (Summer 1985): 227-254. Reprinted in Molyneux 2001: 38-59.
- –––, 2001. Women's Movements in International Perspective, (New York: Palgrave).
- Moser, Caroline O. N., 1993. Gender Planning and Development: Theory, Practice and Training, New York: Routledge.
- Nicholson, Linda (ed.), 1997 The Second Wave: A Reader in Feminist Theory, New York: Routledge.
- ––– (ed.), 1990. Feminism/Postmodernism, New York: Routledge.
- –––, 1986. Gender and History: The Limits of Social Theory in the Age of the Family, New York: Columbia University Press.
- Oakley, Ann, 1976. Woman's Work: The Housewife, Past and Present, New York: Random/Vintage.
- O'Brien, Mary, 1981. The Politics of Reproduction, London: Routledge.
- Okin, Susan Moller, 1989. Gender, Justice and the Family, New York: Basic Books.
- Pateman, Carole, 1988. The Sexual Contract, Stanford: Stanford University Press.
- Pratt, Geraldine, 2004. Working Feminism, Philadelphia: Temple University Press.
- Pyle, Jean and Kathryn Ward, 2003. “Recasting Our Understanding of Gender and Work During Global Restructuring”, International Sociology, 18.3: 461-489.
- Quest Staff (eds.), 1981. Building Feminist Theory: Essays from Quest, New York: Longman.
- Reay, Diane, 2004. “Rethinking Social Class: Qualitative Perspectives on Class and Gender”, in Sharlene Nagy Hesse-Biber and Michelle L. Yaiser, eds. Feminist Perspectives on Social Research, New York: Oxford University Press: 149-154.
- Reed, Evelyn, 1973. Woman's Evolution from Matriarchal Clan to Patriarchal Family, New York: Pathfinder Press.
- Rich, Adrienne, 1980. “Compulsory Heterosexuality and Lesbian Existence”, Signs, vol. 5, n. 4 (Summer 1980): 631-660.
- Richards, Ellen, 1915. The Art of Right Living, Boston: Whitcomb and Barrow.
- Romero, Mary, 1992. Maid in the USA, London: Chapman and Hall.
- Rofel, Lisa, 1999. Other Modernities: Gendered Yearnings in China After Socialism, Berkeley, CA: University of California Press.
- Rosaldo, Michelie Zimbalist and Louise Lamphere (eds.), 1974. Woman, Culture and Society, Stanford: Stanford University Press.
- Rowbotham, Sheila, 1972. Women, Resistance and Revolution, New York: Random/Vintage Books.
- Rubin, Gayle, 1975. “The Traffic in Women”, in Rayna Reiter, ed. Toward a New Anthropology of Women, New York: Monthly Review: 157-210
- Ruddick, Sara, 1989. Maternal Thinking: Toward a Politics of Peace, Boston: Beacon.
- Saffioti, Helen I. B., 1978. Women in Class Society, New York: Monthly Review.
- Sanday, Peggy, 1981. Female Power and Male Dominance: On the Origins of Sexual Inequality, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
- Sangster, Joan, 1995. Earning Respect: The Lives of Working Women in Small-Town Ontario, 1920-1960, Toronto, Canada: University of Toronto Press.
- Sargent, Lydia (ed.), 1981. Women and Revolution, Boston: South End Press.
- Sen, Gita and Caren Grown, 1987. Development, Crises and Alternative Visions, New York: Monthly Review.
- Smart, Carol, 1984. The Ties that Bind: Marriage and the Reproduction of Patriarchal Relations, London: Routledge.
- Smith, Dorothy E., 1989. The Everyday World as Problematic: A Feminist Sociology, Boston: Northeastern University Press.
- –––, 1974. “Women's Perspective as a Radical Critique of Sociology”, Sociological Inquiry, vol. 4, n. 1 (January 1974): 1-13.
- Spivak, Gayatri Chakravorty, 1988. “Can the Subaltern Speak?” In Cary Nelson and Lawrence Grossberg (eds.), Marxism and the Interpretation of Culture, Urbana: University of Illinois Press: 271-313.
- Stephen, Lynn, 2007. Transborder Lives: Indigenous Oaxacans in Mexico, California, and Orgeon, Raleigh and Durham, NC: Duke University Press.
- Tea, Michelle (ed.), 2003. Without a Net: The Female Experience of Growing Up Working Class, Emeryville CA: Seal Press.
- Tokarczyk, Michelle M. and Elizabeth A. Fay (eds.), 1993. Working-Class Women in the Academy: Laborers in the Knowledge Factory, Amherst, MA: University of Massachusetts.
- Tuana, Nancy and Rosemarie Tong (eds.), 1995. Feminism and Philosophy, Boulder: Westview.
- Vogel, Lise, 1995. Woman Questions: Essays for a Materialist Feminism, New York: Routledge.
- Wittig, Monique, 1992. “One is not Born a Woman”, in The Straight Mind and Other Essays, Boston: Beacon Press.
- Walby, Sylvia, 1990. Theorizing Patriarchy, Oxford: Basil Blackwell Ltd.
- Walker, Pat (ed.) 1979. Between Labor and Capital, Boston: South End.
- Young, Iris, 1981. “The Limits of Dual Systems Theory”, in Sargent 1981: 43-70.
How to cite this entry. Preview the PDF version of this entry at the Friends of the SEP Society. Look up this entry topic at the Indiana Philosophy Ontology Project (InPhO). Enhanced bibliography for this entry at PhilPapers, with links to its database.
- ‘Can Development Create Empowerment and Women's Liberation’, by Ann Ferguson, presented at Another World is Possible: Workshop on AlterGlobalizations, San Miguel de Allende, Guanajuato, Mexico, August 5-12, 2004. (mss. available from the author: Philosophy Department, University of Massachusetts, Amherst, MA 01003).
- Center for Women and Work
- Federici, Sylvia. 2008. Precarious Labor: A Feminist Viewpoint, lecture, October 28th 2006, at Bluestockings Radical Bookstore, New York City.
- Women and the Economy
- Marxist Feminist Bibliography
Beauvoir, Simone de | Engels, Friedrich | feminist (interventions): ethics | feminist (interventions): political philosophy | feminist (topics): perspectives on reproduction and the family | feminist (topics): perspectives on sex and gender | feminist (topics): perspectives on sex markets | feminist (topics): perspectives on the self | Marx, Karl