## Notes to Nineteenth Century Geometry

### Notes to the Supplementary Document

1 The informal
characterization of *n*-manifolds in the supplement is not altogether
accurate and may cover some far-fetched monsters that we do not wish to
cover with this concept. For readers who have a smattering of topology
the following characterization is preferable.

(a) LetMbe a set of points. Pick a collection of partially overlapping subsets ofM, orpatches,such that every point ofMlies in at least one patch.(b) If

Uis a patch ofM, there is a one-one mappingfofUonto an open space ofR^{n}, whose inverse we denote byf^{−1}. (R^{n}denotes here the collection of all real numbern-tuples, with the standard topology generated by the open balls.)fis a coordinate system orchartofM; thek-th number in then-tuple assigned by a chartfto a pointPinf's domain is called thek-th coordinate ofPbyf; thek-th coordinate function of chartfis the real-valued function that assigns to each point of the patch itsk-th coordinate byf.(c) There is a collection

Aof charts ofMwhich contains at least one chart defined on each patch ofMand is such that, ifgandhbelong toA, the composite mappingsh○g^{−1}andg○h^{−1}— known ascoordinate transformations— are differentiable to every order wherever they are well defined. (Denote the real numbern-tuple (a_{1}, ... ,a_{n}) bya.h○g^{−1}is well defined ataifais the valued assigned bygto some pointPofMto whichhalso assigns a value. Suppose that the latter valueh(P) = (b_{1},....,b_{n}) =b; then,b=h○g^{−1}(a). Sinceh○g^{−1}maps a region ofR^{n}intoR^{n}, it makes sense to say thath○g^{−1}is differentiable.) Such a collectionAis called anatlasforM.(d) A given atlas

AforMcan be extended in one and only one way to a maximal atlasA_{max}as follows: add toAevery one-one mappinggof a subset ofMonto an open set ofR^{n}which, combined with any charthofA, satisfies the condition of differentiability stated under (c).(e)

Mis given the weakest Hausdorff topology that makes every chartginA_{max}into a homeomorphism. (A topological space is said to be Hausdorff if any two points in it have open neighborhoods that do not overlap.)

The pair (**M**,**A**) is an
*n*-manifold.