Omnipresence is the property of being present everywhere. According to Western theism, God is present everywhere. Divine omnipresence is thus one of the divine attributes, although it has attracted less philosophical attention than such attributes as omnipotence, omniscience, or being eternal. There is, however, an interesting philosophical question involving omnipresence: How can a being who is supposed to be immaterial be present at or located in space? Philosophers have attempted to answer this question by proposing an account of omnipresence in terms that could apply to an immaterial being. This essay will examine some of the details of that approach.
According to classical theism, God is omnipresent, that is, present everywhere. But classical theism also holds that God is immaterial. How can something that is not, or does not have, a body, be located in space? Anselm (1033–1109) noticed that there was something puzzling here. In chapter 20 of his Monologion he argued that “the Supreme Being exists in every place and at all times.” But in the following chapter, he argued that God “exists in no place and at no time.” Finally, he tried to reconcile these “two conclusions—so contradictory according to their utterance, so necessary according to their proof”, by distinguishing two senses of “being wholly in a place.” In one sense those things are wholly in a place “whose magnitude place contains by circumscribing it, and circumscribes by containing it.” In this sense, a thing is contained in a place. But God is not thus contained in space, for it is “a mark of shameless impudence to say that place circumscribes the magnitude of Supreme Truth.” On the other hand, God is in every place in the sense that he is present at every place. According to Anselm, “the Supreme Being must be present as a whole in every different place at once.” This gives us a term for God's relation to space, but not yet an explanation.
We will look at an account developed by St. Thomas Aquinas (1225–1274) in the next section. First, however, one other topic deserves mention. The statement of the problem just given presupposes the traditional view that God does not have a body. Some treatments of the problem of omnipresence, however, seem to have the consequence that God is related to the world as though it is his body. The last section of this entry will take up that issue.
Thomas Aquinas held that God's presence is to be understood in terms of God's power, knowledge and essence. (In this view he followed a formula put forth by Peter Lombard (late 11th C.-1160) in his Sentences, I, xxxvii, 1.) He writes, “God is in all things by his power, inasmuch as all things are subject to his power; he is by his presence in all things, inasmuch as all things are bare and open to his eyes; he is in all things by his essence, inasmuch as he is present to all as the cause of their being” (Summa Theologica I, 8, 3). Aquinas attempts to motivate this claim with some illustrations:
But how he [God] is in other things created by him may be considered from human affairs. A king, for example, is said to be in the whole kingdom by his power, although he is not everywhere present. Again, a thing is said to be by its presence in other things which are subject to its inspection; as things in a house are said to be present to anyone, who nevertheless may not be in substance in every part of the house. Lastly, a thing is said to be substantially or essentially in that place in which its substance is.
Perhaps there is a sense in which a king is present wherever his power extends. In any event, Aquinas seems to have thought so. He distinguished two kinds of being in place: by “contact of dimensive quantity, as bodies are, [and] contact of power” (S.T. I, 8, 2, ad 1). In Summa contra Gentiles he wrote that “an incorporeal thing is related to its presence in something by its power, in the same way that a corporeal thing is related to its presence in something by dimensive quantity,” and he added that “if there were any body possessed of infinite dimensive quantity, it would have to be everywhere. So if there were an incorporeal being possessed of infinite power, it must be everywhere” (SCG III, 68, 3). So the first aspect of God's presence in things is his having power over them. The second aspect is having every thing present to him, having everything “bare and open to his eyes” or being known to him. The third feature, that God is present to things by his essence, is glossed as his being the cause of their being.
This way of understanding God's presence by reference to his power and his knowledge treats the predicate ‘is present’ as applied to God as analogical with its application to ordinary physical things. It is neither univocal (used with the same meaning as in ordinary contexts) nor equivocal (used with an unrelated meaning). Rather, its meaning can be explained by reference to its ordinary sense: God is present at a place just in case there is a physical object that is at that place and God has power over that object, knows what is going on in that object, and God is the cause of that object's existence.
This account of omnipresence has the consequence that, strictly speaking, God is present everywhere that some physical thing is located. Perhaps, however, this is exactly what the medievals had intended. Anselm had said, for example, that “the supreme Nature is more appropriately said to be everywhere, in this sense, that it is in all existing things, than in this sense, namely that it is merely in all places” (Monologion, 23).
More recent philosophers have agreed that God's presence is to be understood analogically. Charles Hartshorne (1897–2000), for example, claimed that “the relation of God to the world must necessarily be conceived, if at all, by analogy with relations given in human experience” (Hartshorne, 1941). Rather than taking the relations to be knowledge of and power over things, however, Hartshorne assumed that God's relation to the world is analogous to that of a human mind's relation to its body.
Hartshorne developed this idea by making distinctions between kinds of knowledge and kinds of power. Some things that human beings know are known immediately, by “vivid and direct intuition”, while other things are known only indirectly or through inference. Hartshorne held that the former kind of knowledge is infallible, and it is the kind of knowledge human beings have of their own thoughts and feelings. Since this kind of knowledge is the highest form of knowledge, it is the kind God has, and he has it with respect to the entire cosmos.
Similarly, some things human beings have power over they control directly; other things can be controlled only indirectly. Human beings have direct control only over their own volitions and movements of their own bodies. Again, since this is the highest kind of power, it is the kind of power God has— and he has it over every part of the universe.
Thus far Hartshorne may be seen as developing the medieval view of divine presence. God is present everywhere by having immediate knowledge and direct power throughout the universe (with the addition that his presence extends to unoccupied regions of space). But Hartshorne endorsed a surprising addition. He held that whatever part of the world a mind knows immediately and controls directly is, by definition, its body. The world, therefore, is God's body.
Richard Swinburne (Swinburne, 1977) also begins his discussion of omnipresence by asking what it is for a person to have a body. Although he insists that God is an immaterial spirit, he supposes this claim to be compatible with a certain “limited embodiment.” Swinburne develops his account by appeal to the notions of a “basic action” (an action one performs, perhaps raising one's arm, without having to perform another action in order to do it) and of “direct knowledge” (knowledge that is neither inferential nor dependent on causal interaction). He then says that “the claim that God controls all things directly and knows about all things without the information coming to him through some causal chain, e.g., without light rays from a distance needing to stimulate his eyes, has often been expressed as the doctrine of God's omnipresence.” Swinburne's account is thus, as he notes, in the spirit of that of Aquinas.
As we have seen, Hartshorne explicitly endorses as a consequence of the doctrine of divine omnipresence that the world is God's body, and Swinburne is willing to accept a “limited embodiment.” But some philosophers have been loath to accept divine embodiment as a consequence of omnipresence. Charles Taliaferro, for example, while endorsing this overall account of omnipresence, notes that the basic actions human beings perform “can involve highly complex physical factors…[including] many neural events and muscle movements, whereas with God there is no such physical complexity” (Taliaferro, 1994). Taliaferro then adds that this immediacy in the case of God's action is precisely a reason to say that “the world does not function as God's body the way material bodies function as our own.” Edward Wierenga adds a second objection. He holds that as Hartshorne and Swinburne develop accounts of God's power and knowledge, God would have the same knowledge of and control over what happens in empty regions of space as he does with respect to those regions occupied by material objects (Wierenga, 1997). In other words, Hartshorne's and Swinburne's accounts of omnipresence, unlike that of Aquinas, do not interpret God's presence as presence in things. But it would be implausible to count a thing as part of God's body on the basis of his knowledge of and power over the region of space that thing occupies, when God's knowledge and power would extend in the same way to that region if it were unoccupied. So it seems as though one could accept the traditional account of divine omnipresence without having to conclude that the world is God's body.
- Anselm, Monologion, in Brian Davies and G. R. Evans (eds.), Anselm of Canterbury: The Major Works, Oxford: Oxford University Press, 1998.
- Aquinas, St. Thomas, Summa contra Gentiles, James F. Anderson (trans.), Notre Dame: University of Notre Dame Press, 1975.
- –––, Summa Theologica, in Basic Writings of Saint Thomas Aquinas, Anton Pegis (ed.), New York: Random House, 1945.
- Hartshorne, Charles, 1941, Man's Vision of God and the Logic of Theism, New York: Harper & Brothers.
- Hudson, Hud, 2009, “Omnipresence,” in Thomas P. Flint and Michael C. Rea (eds.), The Oxford Handbook of Philosophical Theology, Oxford: Oxford University Press, 199–216.
- Swinburne, Richard, 1977, The Coherence of Theism, Oxford: Oxford University Press.
- Taliaferro, Charles, 1994, Consciousness and the Mind of God, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
- Wierenga, Edward, 1988, “Anselm on Omnipresence,” New Scholasticism, 52: 30–41.
- –––, 1997, “Omnipresence,” in Philip L. Quinn and Charles Taliaferro (eds.), A Companion to the Philosophy of Religion, Oxford: Blackwell Publishers, 286–290.
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