Identity and Individuality in Quantum Theory
What are the metaphysical implications of quantum physics? One way of approaching this question is to consider the impact of the theory on our understanding of objects as individuals with well defined identity conditions. According to the ‘Received View’, which was elaborated as the quantum revolution was taking place, quantum theory implies that the fundamental particles of physics cannot be regarded as individual objects in this sense. Such a view has recently motivated the development of non-standard formal systems which are appropriate for representing such non-individual objects. However, it has also been argued that quantum physics is in fact compatible with a metaphysics of individual objects, but that such objects are indistinguishable in a sense which leads to the violation of Leibniz's famous Principle of the Identity of Indiscernibles. This last claim has recently been contested in a way that has reinvigorated the debate over the impact of the theory with regard to this issue. What we have, then, is a form of underdetermination of the metaphysics of individuality by the physics and it has been argued that this has important implications for the realism-antirealism debate.
It is typically held that chairs, trees, rocks, people and many of the so-called ‘everyday’ objects we encounter can be regarded as individuals. The issue, then, is how this individuality is to be understood, or what constitutes the ‘principle’ of individuality. This is an issue which has a very long history in philosophy. A number of approaches to it can be broadly delineated.
We might begin by noting that a tree and rock, say, can be distinguished in terms of their different properties. We might then go further and insist that this also forms the basis for ascribing individuality to them. Even two apparently very similar objects, such as two coins of the same denomination or so-called identical twins, will display some differences in their properties — a scratch here, a scar there, and so on. On this account such differences are sufficient to both distinguish and individuate the objects. This forms the basis of the so-called ‘bundle’ view of objects, according to which an object is nothing but a bundle of properties. In order to guarantee individuation, no two objects can then be absolutely indistinguishable, or indiscernible, in the sense of possessing exactly the same set of properties. This last claim has been expressed as the Principle of Identity of Indiscernibles and it ensures the individuality of the objects that fall under its scope; we shall return to it below.
However, this approach has been criticised on the grounds (among others) that we can surely conceive of two absolutely indistinguishable objects: thinking of Star Trek, we could imagine a replicator device which precisely reproduces an object, such as a coin or even a person, giving two such objects with exactly the same set of properties. Not quite, one might respond, since these two objects do not and indeed cannot exist at the same place at the same time; that is, they do not possess the same spatio-temporal properties. In terms of these properties, then, the objects can still be distinguished and hence regarded as different individuals. Clearly, then, this approach to the issue of individuality must be underpinned by the assumption that individual objects are impenetrable.
A more thorough-going criticism of this property based approach to individuality insists that it conflates epistemological issues concerning how we distinguish objects, with ontological issues concerning the metaphysical basis of individuality. Thus, it is argued, to talk of distinguishability requires at least two objects but we can imagine a universe in which there exists only one. In such a situation, it is claimed, it would be inappropriate to say that the object is distinguishable but not that it is an individual. Although we do not actually find ourselves in such situations, of course, still, it is insisted, distinguishability and individuality should be kept conceptually distinct.
If this line of argument is accepted, then the principle of individuality must be sought in something over and above the properties of an object. One candidate is the notion of substance, in which properties are taken to inhere in some way. Locke famously described substance as a ‘something, we know not what’, since to describe it we would have to talk of its properties, but bare substance, by its very nature, has no properties itself.
Alternatively, the individuality of an object has been expressed in terms of its ‘haecceity’ or ‘primitive thisness’ (Adams 1979). As the name suggests, this is taken to be the primitive basis of individuality, which cannot be analysed further. However, it has also been identified with the notion of self-identity, understood as a relational property (Adams ibid.) and expressed more formally as ‘a=a’. Each individual is understood to be identical to itself. This may seem like a form of the property-based approach we started with, but self-identity is a rather peculiar kind of property.
This is just a sketch of some of the various positions that have been adopted. There has been considerable debate over which of them applies to the everyday objects mentioned above. But at least it is generally agreed that such objects should be regarded as individuals to begin with. What about the fundamental objects posited by current physical theories, such as electrons, protons, neutrons etc.? Can these be regarded as individuals? One response is that they cannot, since they behave very differently in aggregates from ‘classical’ individuals.
The argument for the above conclusion — that the fundamental objects of physics cannot be regarded as individuals — can be summed up as follows: First of all, both ‘classical’ and ‘quantal’ objects of the same kind (e.g. electrons) can be regarded as indistinguishable in the sense of possessing the same intrinsic properties, such as rest mass, charge, spin etc. Consider now the distribution of two such indistinguishable particles over two boxes, or two states in general:
In classical physics, (3) is given a weight of twice that of (1) or (2), corresponding to the two ways the former can be achieved by permuting the particles. This gives us four combinations or complexions in total and hence we can conclude that the probability of finding one particle in each state, for example, is 1/2. (Note that it is assumed that none of the four combinations is regarded as privileged in any way, so each is just as likely to occur.) This is an example of the well-known ‘Maxwell-Boltzmann’ statistics to which, it is claimed, thermodynamics was reduced at the turn of the century.
In quantum statistical mechanics, however, there are two ‘standard’ possibilities: one for which there are three possible arrangements in the above situation (both particles in one box, both particles in the other, and one in each box), giving ‘Bose-Einstein’ statistics; and one for which there is only one arrangement (one particle in each box), giving ‘Fermi-Dirac’ statistics. Setting aside the differences between these two kinds of quantum statistics, the important point for the present discussion is that in the quantum case, a permutation of the particles is not regarded as giving rise to a new arrangement. This result lies at the very heart of quantum physics; putting things slightly more formally, it is expressed by the so-called ‘Indistinguishability Postulate’:
If a particle permutation P is applied to any state function for an assembly of particles, then there is no way of distinguishing the resulting permuted state function from the original unpermuted one by means of any observation at any time.
(The state function of quantum mechanics determines the probability of measurement results. Hence what the Indistinguishability Postulate expresses is that a particle permutation does not lead to any difference in the probabilities for measurement outcomes.)
The argument then continues as follows: that a permutation of the particles is counted as giving a different arrangement in classical statistical mechanics implies that, although they are indistinguishable, such particles can be regarded as individuals (indeed, Boltzmann himself made this explicit in the first axiom of his ‘Lectures on Mechanics’). Since this individuality resides in something over and above the intrinsic properties of the particles in terms of which they can be regarded as indistinguishable, it has been called ‘Transcendental Individuality’ by Post (1963). This notion can be cashed out in various well-known ways, as indicated in the Introduction above: in terms of some kind of underlying Lockean substance (French 1989a), for example, or in terms of primitive thisness (Teller 1995). More generally, one might approach it in modal fashion, through the doctrine of haecceitism: this asserts that two possible worlds may describe some individual in qualitatively the same way (that is, as possessing the same set of properties), yet represent that individual differently by ascribing a different haecceity or thisness in each world, or more generally, by ascribing some non-qualitative aspect to the individual (Lewis 1986; Huggett 1999).
Conversely, it is argued, if such permutations are not counted in quantum statistics, it follows that quantal particles cannot be regarded as individuals in any of these senses (Post 1963). In other words, quantal objects are very different from most everyday objects in that they are ‘non-individuals’, in some sense.
This radical metaphysical conclusion can be traced back to the reflections of Born and Heisenberg themselves and was further elaborated in the very earliest discussions of the foundations of quantum physics. As Weyl put it in his classic text:
… the possibility that one of the identical twins Mike and Ike is in the quantum state E1 and the other in the quantum state E2 does not include two differentiable cases which are permuted on permuting Mike and Ike; it is impossible for either of these individuals to retain his identity so that one of them will always be able to say ‘I'm Mike’ and the other ‘I'm Ike.’ Even in principle one cannot demand an alibi of an electron! (Weyl 1931)
Recalling the discussion sketched in the Introduction, if we were to create a twin using some kind of Star trek replicator, say, then in the classical domain such a twin could insist that ‘I'm here and she's there’ or, more generally, ‘I'm in this state and she's in that one’ and ‘swapping us over makes a difference’. In the classical domain each (indistinguishable) twin has a metaphysical ‘alibi’ grounded in their individuality. Weyl's point is that in quantum mechanics, they do not.
This conclusion — that quantal objects are not individuals — is not the whole story, however. First of all, the contrast between classical and quantum physics with regard to individuality and non-individuality is not as straightforward as it might seem. As already indicated, the above account involving permutations of particles in boxes appears to fit nicely with an understanding of individuality in terms of Lockean substance or primitive thisness. However, one can give an alternative field-theoretic account in which particles are represented as dichotomic ‘Yes/No’ fields: with such a field, the field amplitude is simply ‘Yes’ at location x if the ‘particle’ is present at x and ‘No’ if it is not (Redhead 1983). On this account, individuality is conferred via spatio-temporal location together with the assumption of impenetrability mentioned in the Introduction. Thus the above account of particle individuality in terms of either Lockean substance or primitive thisness is not necessary for classical statistical mechanics (French 1989a).
The particles-and-boxes picture above corresponds to the physicists' multidimensional ‘phase space’, which describes which individuals have which properties, whereas the field- theoretic representation corresponds to ‘distribution space’, which simply describes which properties are instantiated in what numbers. Huggett has pointed out that the former supports haecceitism, whereas the latter does not and, furthermore, that the empirical evidence provides no basis for choosing between these two spaces (Huggett 1999). Thus the claim that classical statistical mechanics is wedded to haecceitism also becomes suspect.
Secondly, the above argument from permutations can be considered from a radically different perspective. In the classical case the situations with one particle in each box are given a weight of ‘2’ in the counting of possible arrangements. In the case of quantum statistics this situation is given a weight of ‘1’. With this weighting, there are two possible statistics, however: Bose-Einstein, corresponding to a symmetric state function for the assembly of particles and Fermi-Dirac, corresponding to an anti-symmetric state function. Given the Indistinguishability Postulate, it can be shown that symmetric state functions will always remain symmetric and anti-symmetric always anti-symmetric. Thus, if the initial condition is imposed that the state of the system is either symmetric or anti-symmetric, then only one of the two possibilities — Bose-Einstein or Fermi-Dirac — is ever available to the system, and this explains why the weighting assigned to ‘one particle in each state’ is half the classical value. This gives us an alternative way of understanding the difference between classical and quantum statistics, not in terms of the lack of individuality of the particles, but rather in terms of which states are accessible to them (French and Redhead 1988; French 1989a). In other words, the implication of the different ‘counting’ in quantum statistics is not that the particles are non-individuals in some sense, but that there are different sets of states available to them, compared to the classical case. On this view, the particles can still be regarded as individuals — however their individuality is to be understood metaphysically.
Both of these perspectives raise interesting metaphysical issues. Let us consider, first, Leibniz's famous Principle of the Identity of Indiscernibles in the context of the particles-as-individuals package.
It should be emphasised, first of all, that quantal particles are indistinguishable in a much stronger sense than classical particles. It is not just that two or more electrons, say, possess all intrinsic properties in common but that — on the standard understanding — no measurement whatsoever could in principle determine which one is which. If the non-intrinsic, state-dependent properties are identified with all the monadic or relational properties which can be expressed in terms of physical magnitudes associated with self-adjoint operators that can be defined for the particles, then it can be shown that two bosons or two fermions in a joint symmetric or anti-symmetric state respectively have the same monadic properties and the same relational properties one to another (French and Redhead 1988; see also Butterfield 1993). This has immediate implications for Leibniz's Principle of the Identity of Indiscernibles which, expressed crudely, insists that two things which are indiscernible, must be, in fact, identical.
Setting aside the historical issue of Leibniz's own attitude, supporters of the Principle have tended to retreat from the claim that it is necessary to the view that it is at least contingently true. There is the further issue as to how the Principle should be characterised and, in particular, there is the question of what properties are to be included within the scope of those relevant to judgments of indiscernibility. Excluding the peculiar property of self-identity, three forms of the Principle can be distinguished according to the properties involved: the weakest form, PII(1), states that it is not possible for two individuals to possess all properties and relations in common; the next strongest, PII(2), excludes spatio-temporal properties from this description; and the strongest form, PII(3), includes only monadic, non-relational properties. Thus, for example, PII(3) is the claim that no two individuals can possess all the same monadic properties (a strong claim indeed, although it is one way of understanding Leibniz's own view).
In fact, PII(2) and PII(3) are clearly violated in classical physics, where distinct particles of the same kind are typically regarded as indistinguishable in the sense of possessing all intrinsic properties in common and such properties are regarded as non-relational in general and non-spatio-temporal in particular. (Of course, Leibniz himself would not have been perturbed by this result, since he took the Principle of Identity of Indiscernibles to ultimately apply only to ‘monads’, which were the fundamental entities of his ontology. Physical objects such as particles were regarded by him as merely ‘well founded phenomena’.) However, PII(1) is not violated classically, since classical statistical mechanics typically assumes that such particles are impenetrable, in precisely the sense that their spatio-temporal trajectories cannot overlap. Hence they can be individuated via their spatio-temporal properties, as indicated above.
The situation appears to be very different in quantum mechanics, however. If the particles are taken to possess both their intrinsic and state-dependent properties in common, as suggested above, then there is a sense in which even the weakest form of the Principle, PII(1), fails (Cortes 1976; Teller 1983; French 1989b; for an alternative view, see van Fraassen 1985 and 1991). On this understanding, the Principle of Identity of Indiscernibles is actually false. Hence it cannot be used to effectively guarantee individuation via the state-dependent properties by analogy with the classical case. If one wishes to maintain that quantum particles are individuals, then their individuality will have to be taken as conferred by Lockean substance, primitive thisness or, in general, some form of non-qualitative haecceistic difference.
However, this conclusion has been challenged. First of all, Massimi (Massimi 2001; see also Mittelstaedt and Castellani 2000) has questioned whether quantum particles can be said to possess the relevant state-dependent properties in the sense that would be damaging to PII. However, her argument only applies to monadic, state-dependent properties and so the above conclusion still holds for PII(2) and PII(3). In effect, what Massimi has shown is that those versions of PII which allow relations to individuate are not the weakest forms of the Principle, but the only forms which are applicable.
This is interesting because Saunders has developed a form of PII, based on the work of Quine, which allows objects to be ‘weakly’ discernible in relational terms (Saunders 2003 and 2006). Consider for example, two fermions in a spherically-symmetric singlet state. The fermions are not only indistinguishable but also have exactly the same spatio-temporal properties and relations in themselves and everything else. However, each satisfies the symmetric but irreflexive relation of ‘having opposite direction of each component of spin to …’ and so they are weakly discernible and hence not identified according to Saunders’ form of the principle. Thus their individuality can be grounded in these irreflexive relations via this Quinean form of PII, without having to appeal to anything like primitive thisness. This result has also been extended to bosons (Saunders and Muller 2008; Muller and Seevinck 2009), although some of the details are contentious (in particular with regard to the interpretation of some of the mathematical features that are appealed to). Leaving aside these technical concerns, there is the worry that the appeal to irreflexive relations in order to ground the individuality of the objects which bear such relations involves a circularity: in order to appeal to such relations, one has had to already individuate the particles which are so related and the numerical diversity of the particles has been presupposed by the relation which hence cannot account for it (see French and Krause 2006; Hawley 2006 and 2009). One response to this worry would be to question the underlying assumption that relata have the relevant ontological priority over relations and adopt some form of structuralist view of objects according to which the relata are, in some sense ‘intersections’ of relations or, more mildly perhaps, neither are accorded priority but come as a ‘package’ as it were (for further discussion see French and Krause 2006; French and Ladyman 2011). I shall return to the structuralist perspective shortly (see also Muller 2009). More generally, however, it has been argued that what weak discernibility grounds is merely numerical distinctness, rather than the robust sense of discernibility that PII was originally concerned with (Ladyman and Bigaj 2010). If PII is understood as the claim that distinct objects must differ in some way, then, it is argued, weakly discernible objects do not differ in this sense and hence PII remains violated by quantum mechanics.
The above considerations are typically presented within the ‘orthodox’ interpretation of quantum mechanics but there are a further set of responses which step outside of this. Thus van Fraassen, for example (van Fraassen 1985 and 1991) has advocated a form of ‘modal’ interpretation, in the context of which (standard) PII can be retained. At the core of this approach lies a distinction between two kinds of state: the ‘value’ state, which is specified by stating which observables have values and what they are; and the ‘dynamic’ state, which is specified by stating how the system will develop both if isolated and if acted upon in some definite fashion. The evolution of the latter is deterministic, in accordance with Schroedinger’s equation, but the value state changes unpredictably, within the limits set by the dynamic state (for criticism see some of the papers in Dieks and Vermaas 1998). Because the actual values of observables do not increase predictive power if added to the relevant dynamic state description, they are deemed to be ‘empirically superfluous’. In the case of fermions, at least, distinct value states can be assigned to each particle and PII saved.
However concerns have been raised over the objectivity of such value state attributions (Massimi op. cit., p. 318, fn. 11) and one might regard the associated ‘empirically superfluous’ properties as merely conceptual. This bears on the important issue of what kinds of properties may be admitted to lie within the scope of the Principle. Clearly some would appear to be beyond the pale: saving PII by regarding the particle labels themselves as intrinsic properties is surely unacceptable. Furthermore, bosons must be treated differently, since they can have the same dynamic and value states. In this case, van Fraassen suggests that each boson is individuated by its history, where this is again to be understood as ‘empirically superfluous’. Of course, it might seem odd that an approach which originally sought to avoid the grounding of the individuality of objects in something like Lockean substance should find itself having to include empirically superfluous factors within the scope of PII.
Another ‘unorthodox’ approach incorporates the Bohmian interpretation of quantum mechanics and in particular it has been suggested that it might form the basis of an alternative conception of particle individuality in terms of their spatio-temporal trajectories. As is well known, attributing distinguishing spatio-temporal trajectories to quantum particles faces acute difficulties under the orthodox interpretation of quantum mechanics. On the Bohm interpretation, however, they are allowed; indeed, the only observable admitted is that of position. What this interpretation gives us is a dual ontology of point particles plus `pilot’ wave, where the role of the latter is to determine the instantaneous velocities of the former through the so-called ‘guidance equations’. These ‘complete’ the standard formulation of quantum mechanics so that, in addition to the quantum state, whose development is determined by the Schrödinger equation, there is also a set of single-particle trajectories, each of which is determined by the guidance equation, plus the initial positions of the particles (for a review see Cushing et al. 1996). Such an interpretation appears to provide a natural home for the metaphysical package which takes quantum particles to be individuals (see, for example, Brown et al. 1999) and, indeed, a form of PII(1) can now be defended against the above conclusion.
Nevertheless, things are not quite as straightforward as they might seem: it has been argued that intrinsic properties cannot be considered as possessed solely by the particles but in some sense must be assigned to the pilot wave as well (Brown 1994). Again, there is an ontological cost involved in retaining the view of particles as individuals (for further details, see French and Krause 2006).
What if one were to consider the evolution of the system concerned in the multi-dimensional ‘configuration space’ in terms of which the wave function must be described? Here the implications of considering particle permutations are encoded in the topology of such a space by identifying points corresponding to such a permutation and thereby constructing what is known as the ‘reduced configuration space’ formed by the action of the permutation group on the full configuration space. As in the case of ‘ordinary’ space-time, some form of ‘impenetrability assumption’ must be adopted to ensure that — in the case of those particles that are not bosons at least — no two particles occupy the same point of this reduced space.
The issue now is to come up with an appropriate metaphysical underpinning of this assumption. Obviously one could opt for some form of Lockean substance but that takes us back to a substantivalist account of individuality. Alternatively one could introduce Bohmian mechanics into this context: it turns out that the guidance equations ensure the non-coincidence of the relevant particle trajectories (Brown et al. 1999). In effect ‘impenetrability’ is built into the dynamics and thus the configuration space approach and de Broglie-Bohm interpretation fit nicely together. There is, as always, more to say (French and Krause 2006); the alternative to these sorts of accounts is to give up on particle individuality entirely and adopt the view that quantum particles are non-individuals in some sense.
Of course, if the latter alternative is adopted then Leibniz's Principle does not apply. However, what sense can we make of the notion of ‘non-individuality’?
Let us recall Weyl’s statement that one can’t ask alibis of electrons. Dalla Chiara and Toraldo di Francia refer to quantum physics as ‘the land of anonymity’, in the sense that, on this view,the particles cannot be uniquely labelled (1993). They ask, then, how can we talk about what happens in such a land? Their suggestion is that quantal particles can be regarded as ‘intensional-like entities’, where the intensions are represented by conjunctions of intrinsic properties. The extension of the natural kind, ‘electron’, say, is then given by the collection of indistinguishable elements, or a ‘quaset’. Quaset theory then gives the possibility of a semantics for quantum particles without alibis (ibid.).
Alternatively, but relatedly, non-individuality can be understood in terms of a loss of self-identity. This suggestion can be found most prominently in the philosophical reflections of Born, Schrödinger, Hesse and Post (Born 1943; Schrödinger 1952; Hesse 1963; Post 1963). It is immediately and clearly problematic, however: how can we have objects that are not self-identical? Such self-identity seems bound up with the very notion of an object in the sense that it is an essential part of what it is to be an object. This intuition is summed up in the Quinean slogan, ‘no entity without identity’ (Quine 1969), with all its attendant consequences regarding reference etc.
However, Barcan Marcus has offered an alternative perspective, insisting on ‘No identity without entity.’ (Marcus 1993) and arguing that although ‘… all terms may “refer” to objects… not all objects are things, where a thing is at least that about which it is appropriate to assert the identity relation.’ (ibid., p. 25) Object-reference then becomes a wider notion than thing-reference. Within such a framework, we can then begin to get a formal grip on the notion of objects which are not self-identical through so-called ‘Schrödinger logics’, introduced by da Costa (da Costa and Krause 1994) These are many-sorted logics in which the expression x = y is not a well-formed formula in general; it is where x and y are one sort of term, but not for the other sort corresponding to quantum objects. A semantics for such logics can be given in terms of ‘quasi-sets’ (da Costa and Krause 1997). The motivation behind such developments is the idea that collections of quantum objects cannot be considered as sets in the usual Cantorian sense of ‘… collections into a whole of definite, distinct objects of our intuition or of our thought.’ (Cantor 1955, p. 85). Quasi-set theory incorporates two kinds of basic posits or ‘Urelemente’: m-atoms, whose intended interpretation are the quantal objects and M-atoms, which stand for the ‘everyday’ objects, and which fall within the remit of classical set theory with Ur-elements. Quasi-sets are then the collections obtained by applying the usual Zermelo-Fraenkel framework plus Ur-element ZFU-like axioms to a basic domain composed of m-atoms, M-atoms and aggregates of them (Krause 1992; for a comparison of qua-set theory with quasi-set theory, see Dalla Chiara, Giuntini and Krause 1998).
These developments supply the beginnings of a categorial framework for quantum ‘non- individuality’, according to which collections of quantum entities have a (kind of) cardinality but not an ordinality (extensive details are given in French and Krause 2006; see also Domenach and Holik 2007). Further developments of this framework can be found in French and Krause 2010 and a discussion of both these formal details and of the basis for attributing ‘non-individuality’ to quantum objects is presented in Bueno et. al. forthcoming. Both the framework and the underlying metaphysics has been extended into the foundations of Quantum Field Theory, where it has been argued, one has non-individual ‘quanta’ (Teller 1995). A form of quasi-set theory may offer one way of formally capturing this notion (French and Krause 1999; 2006). It has also been suggested that this offers a way of understanding the sense in which quantum objects may be regarded as vague (French and Krause 2003), although it has been questioned whether vagueness is the appropriate notion here (Darby 2010) and also whether quasi-set theory offers the most perspicuous way of capturing this sense (Smith 2008).
We now appear to have an interesting situation. Quantum mechanics is compatible with two distinct metaphysical ‘packages’, one in which the particles are regarded as individuals and one in which they are not. Thus, we have a form of ‘underdetermination’ of the metaphysics by the physics (see van Fraassen 1985 and 1991; French 1989a; Huggett 1997). This has implications for the broader issue of realism within the philosophy of science. If asked to spell out her beliefs, the realist will point to currently accepted fundamental physics, such as quantum mechanics, and insist that the world is, at least approximately, however the physics says it is. Of course, there are the well-known problems of ontological change (giving rise to the so-called pessimistic meta-induction) and underdetermination of theories by the data. However, the above underdetermination of metaphysical packages seems to pose an even more fundamental problem, as the physics involved is well entrenched and the difference in the metaphysics seemingly as wide as it could be. These packages support dramatically different world-views: one in which quantal particles are individuals and one in which they are not. The realist must then face the question: which package corresponds to the world? The physics itself can offer no help whatsoever and any justification for choosing one package over the other which appeals to metaphysical considerations, for example, runs the risk of drastically watering down the science in scientific realism.
Faced with this situation, the anti-realist may conclude ‘so much for metaphysics’ and insist that all that theories can tell us is how the world could be (van Fraassen 1991). A possible alternative would be for realism to retreat from a metaphysics of objects entirely and develop an ontology of structure compatible with the physics (Ladyman 1998 and 2009). An early attempt to do this in the quantum context can be seen in the work of Cassirer who noted the implications for our notion of individual objects and concluded that particles were describable only as ‘“points of intersection” of certain relations’ (1937, p. 180) Setting aside the neo-Kantian elements in Cassirer's structuralism, the articulation of this view of quantum entities remains a matter of considerable debate (Ladyman and Ross 2007; French and Ladyman 2011).
Alternatively, it has been argued that the underdetermination can in fact be ‘broken’ because the package of particles-as-non-individuals meshes better with quantum field theory (QFT) where, it is claimed, talk of individuals is avoided from the word go (Post 1963; Redhead and Teller 1991 and 1992; Teller 1995). The central argument for such a claim focuses on the above view that particles may be seen as individuals subject to restrictions on the sets of states they may occupy. The states that are inaccessible to the particles of a particular kind can be seen as corresponding to just so much ‘surplus structure’. In particular, if the view of particles as individuals is adopted, then it is entirely mysterious as to why a particular sub-set of these inaccessible, surplus states, namely those that are non-symmetric, are not actually realised. Applying the general methodological principle that a theory which does not contain such surplus structure is to be preferred over one that does, Redhead and Teller conclude that we have grounds for preferring the non-individuals approach and the afore-mentioned mystery simply does not arise.
This line of argument has been criticised by Huggett on the grounds that the apparent mystery is a mere fabrication: the inaccessible non-symmetric states can be ruled out as simply not physically possible (Huggett 1995). The surplus structure, then, is a consequence of the representation chosen and has no further metaphysical significance. At issue here is the claim that a theory should tell us why a state of affairs is not possible. Consider the possible state of affairs in which a cold cup of tea spontaneously starts to boil. Statistical mechanics can explain why we never observe such a possibility, whereas the quantum-particles-as-individuals view cannot explain why we never observe non-symmetric states (Teller 1998).
However, the analogy is problematic. Statistical mechanics does not say that the above situation never occurs but only that the probability of its occurrence is extremely low. The question then reduces to that of ‘why is this probability so low?’ The answer to that is typically given in terms of the very low number of states corresponding to the tea boiling compared to the vast number of states for which it remains cold. Why, then, this disparity in the number of accessible states? Or, equivalently, why do we find ourselves in situations in which entropy increases? One answer takes us back to the initial conditions of the big bang. Perhaps a similar line can be taken in the case of quantum statistics. Why do we never observe non-symmetric states? Because that is the way the universe is and we should not expect quantum mechanics alone to have to explain why certain initial conditions obtain and not others. Here we recall that the symmetry of the Hamiltonian ensures that if a particle is in a state of a particular symmetry to begin with, it will remain in states of that symmetry. Hence, if non-symmetric states do not feature in the initial conditions which held at the beginning of the universe, they will remain forever inaccessible to the particles. The issue then turns on different views of the significance of the above ‘surplus structure’. (A detailed critique of the presuppositions of the Redhead and Teller argument can also be found in Balousek, forthcoming.)
Furthermore, even if we accept the methodological principle of ‘the less surplus structure the better’, it is not clear that QFT understood in terms of non-individual ‘quanta’ offers a significant advantage in this respect. Indeed, it has been argued that the formalism of QFT is compatible with the alternative package of metaphysically individual particles. Van Fraassen has pressed this claim (1991), drawing on de Muynck's construction of state spaces for quantum field theory which involve labelled particles (1975). However, Butterfield has suggested that the existence of states that are superpositions of particle number, within QFT, undermines the equivalence (1993). Nevertheless, Huggett insists, in this case the undermining is empirical, rather than methodological (Huggett 1995). When the number is constant, it is the states for arbitrary numbers of particles which are so much surplus structure and now, if the methodological argument is applied, it is the individuals package which is to be preferred.
There is considerable scope for further exploration of these concerns in the context of quantum field theory (see also Auyang 1995) and a collection of historical and philosophical reflections on relevant issues can be found in Cao (1999).
A further approach to this underdetermination is to reject both packages and seek a third way. Thus Morganti has argued that both of the above metaphysical packages assume that everything qualitative about a particle must be encoded in terms of a property that it possesses (Morganti 2009). Dropping this assumption allows us to consider quantum statistics as describing ‘inherent’ properties of the assembly as a whole. The (anti-)symmetry of the relevant states is then accounted for in terms of the disposition of the system to give rise to certain correlated outcomes upon measurement. This is presented as an extension of Teller's ‘relational holism’ (Teller 1989; incorporated into the particles-as-individuals package in French and Krause 2006), and relatedly, the notion of ‘inherence’ involves the denial of the supervenience of the properties of the whole on those of the parts. However, as just indicated, it comes with a cost: that of admitting holistic dispositional properties and the metaphysics of these in the quantum context requires further development, as does the sense in which such inherent properties ‘emerge’ when systems interact. Earlier and along similar metaphysical lines, Lavine suggested that quantum particles can be regarded as the smallest possible amounts of ‘stuff’ and, crucially, that a multi-particle state represents a further amount of stuff such that it does not contain proper parts (1991). Such a view, he claims, avoids the metaphysically problematic aspects of both the individuals and non-individuals packages. Of course, there are then the issues of the metaphysics and logic of ‘stuff’, but, he insists, these are familiar and not peculiar to quantum mechanics. One such issue concerns the nature of ‘stuff’: is it our familiar primitive substance? Substance as a fundamental metaphysical primitive faces acute difficulties and it has been suggested that it should be dropped in favour of an analysis of individual objects in terms of ‘tropes’, where a trope is an individual instance of a property or a relation. If this notion is broadened to include an individual whose existence depends on that of another individual which is not a part of it then, it is claimed, this notion may be flexible enough to accommodate quantum physics (Simons 1998). Another issue concerns the manner in which ‘stuff’ combines: how do we go from the amounts of stuff represented by two independent photons, to the amount represented by a joint two-photon state? The analogies Lavine gives are well known: drops of water, money in the bank, bumps on a rope (Teller 1983; Hesse 1963). Of course, these may also be appropriated by the non-individual objects view but, more significantly, they are suggestive of a field-theoretic approach in which the ‘stuff’ in question is the quantum field.
Here we return to issues concerning the metaphysics of quantum field theory and it is worth pointing out that underdetermination may arise here too. In classical physics we are faced with a choice between the view of field quantities as properties of space-time points and the view of the field as a kind of substance or stuff. In the case of quantum field theory, the field quantities are not well-defined at space-time points (because of difficulties in defining exact locational states in quantum field theory). Instead they are regarded as ‘smeared’ over space-time regions (see Teller 1999). This does not remove the possibility of underdetermination, of course, as it now arises between the understanding of the quantum field in terms of properties of space-time regions and the understanding of the field in terms of substance. However, further issues then arise with regard to the nature of space-time itself. Conceiving of a field in terms of a set of properties meshes comfortably with the approach that takes space-time to be a kind of substance or ‘stuff’. This approach faces well known difficulties in the context of modern physics (see, for example, Earman 1989). Unfortunately, the above properties-based account of a field is incompatible with the alternative approach to space-time, which takes it to be merely a system of relations (such as contiguity) between physical bodies: if the field quantities are properties of space-time regions and the latter are understood, ultimately, to be reducible to relations between physical objects, where the latter are conceived of in field-theoretic terms, then a circularity appears to arise. If General Relativity is understood as supporting this ‘relationist’ account of space-time, then we appear to have a significant incompatibility between these two fundamental theories of modern physics (Rovelli 1999). Perhaps, as Stachel has suggested, this incompatibility can be traced back to the sharp, metaphysical distinction between things and relations between things (Stachel 1999). A broadly ‘structural realist’ approach might offer a way around this incompatibility by regarding both space-time and the quantum field in structural terms (see Auyang 1995 and the papers in Rickles, French & Saatsi 2007).
Such an approach can also be articulated within the particle picture. Returning to the more developed views of both Weyl and Wigner, particles can be understood as ontologically constituted, in group theoretical terms, as sets of invariants, such as rest mass, charge or spin, for example (Castellani 1998a). From this perspective, both the individuality and non-individuality packages get off on the wrong feet, as it were, by taking it that there is something — transcendental individuality — that is present in the one case and ‘lost’ in the other. The suggestion that particles might be seen as aspects of ‘world structure’ again fits nicely with structural realism (see Ladyman and Ross 2007; French and Ladyman 2011).
Excellent overviews of the above and related issues can be found in Huggett 1997 and Castellani 1998b.
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Thanks to Rob Clifton, Nick Huggett, Decio Krause and James Ladyman for helpful comments.