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Structural realism is considered by many realists and antirealists alike as the most defensible form of scientific realism. There are now many forms of structural realism and an extensive literature about them. There are interesting connections with debates in metaphysics, philosophy of physics and philosophy of mathematics. This entry is intended to be a comprehensive survey of the field.
- 1. Introduction
- 2. The Best of Both Worlds?
- 3. Epistemic Structural Realism (ESR)
- 4. Ontic Structural Realism (OSR)
- 5. Objections to Structural Realism
- 6. Other Structuralisms
- Other Internet Resources
- Related Entries
Scientific realism is the view that we ought to believe in the unobservable entities posited by our most successful scientific theories. It is widely held that the most powerful argument in favour of scientific realism is the no-miracles argument, according to which the success of science would be miraculous if scientific theories were not at least approximately true descriptions of the world. While the underdetermination argument is often cited as giving grounds for scepticism about theories of unobservable entities, arguably the most powerful arguments against scientific realism are based on the history of radical theory change in science. The best-known of these arguments, although not necessarily the most compelling of them, is the notorious pessimistic meta-induction, according to which reflection on the abandonment of theories in the history of science motivates the expectation that our best current scientific theories will themselves be abandoned, and hence that we ought not to assent to them.
Structural realism was introduced into contemporary philosophy of science by John Worrall in 1989 as a way to break the impasse that results from taking both arguments seriously, and have “the best of both worlds” in the debate about scientific realism. With respect to the case of the transition in nineteenth-century optics from Fresnel's elastic solid ether theory to Maxwell's theory of the electromagnetic field, Worrall argues that:
There was an important element of continuity in the shift from Fresnel to Maxwell—and this was much more than a simple question of carrying over the successful empirical content into the new theory. At the same time it was rather less than a carrying over of the full theoretical content or full theoretical mechanisms (even in “approximate” form) … There was continuity or accumulation in the shift, but the continuity is one of form or structure, not of content. (1989, 117)
According to Worrall, we should not accept standard scientific realism, which asserts that the nature of the unobservable objects that cause the phenomena we observe is correctly described by our best theories. However, neither should we be antirealists about science. Rather, we should adopt structural realism and epistemically commit ourselves only to the mathematical or structural content of our theories. Since there is (says Worrall) retention of structure across theory change, structural realism both (a) avoids the force of the pessimistic meta-induction (by not committing us to belief in the theory's description of the furniture of the world) and (b) does not make the success of science (especially the novel predictions of mature physical theories) seem miraculous (by committing us to the claim that the theory's structure, over and above its empirical content, describes the world).
Worrall's paper has been widely cited and has spawned an extensive literature in which various varieties of structural realism are advocated. These contemporary debates recapitulate the work of some of the greatest philosophers of science. Worrall says he found his structural realism in Henri Poincaré (1905, 1906) whose structuralism was combined with neo-Kantian views about the nature of arithmetic and group theory, and with conventionalism about the geometry of space and time. (The prevalence of Kantian themes in the literature on structural realism is discussed further below; for more on Poincaré see Giedymin 1982, Gower 2000 and Zahar 1994, 2001.) Ernan McMullin (1990) argues that Pierre Duhem was a realist about the relations found in laws but not about explanations in terms of an ontology. According to Worrall (1989), Barry Gower (2000) and Elie Zahar (2001), Duhem too was a kind of structural realist, though there are passages in Duhem that more readily lend themselves to an instrumentalist interpretation. Gower's (2000) historical survey of structural realism also discusses how structuralism figures in the thought of Ernst Cassirer, Moritz Schlick, Rudolf Carnap and Bertrand Russell. Stathis Psillos (1999) has explored the connections between structuralism and the Ramsey-sentence approach to scientific theory as it figured in the development of Carnap's philosophy from logical positivism to ontologically relativist empiricism. Other important pioneers of structuralism about science include Arthur Eddington (see French 2003), Grover Maxwell (see Ladyman 1998 and 3.1 below) and Hermann Weyl (see Ryckman 2005).
Ladyman (1998) distinguished epistemic and ontic forms of structural realism, and many of those who have taken up structural realism have been philosophers of physics who have developed the latter. Others have made it clear that their structural realism is a purely epistemological refinement of scientific realism. On the other hand, Bas van Fraassen (1997, 2006, 2008) defends an empiricist and non-realist form of structuralism about science, motivated by an illuminating reconstruction of the origins of structuralism in the debate about the epistemology of physical geometry in the nineteenth century, and more generally in the progressive mathematisation of science. Yet more kinds of structuralism now abound in contemporary analytic philosophy. These include causal structuralism concerning the individuation of properties, mathematical structuralism concerning the nature of mathematical objects, and structuralism about laws and dispositions. The relationship between structural realism and these views is a matter for further work. While many realists and antirealists alike are agreed that the most viable form of scientific realism is structural realism, many others continue to defend other forms of scientific realism. This article reviews the issues and provides a guide for further reading.
Scientific realism became dominant in philosophy of science after the demise of the forms of antirealism about science associated with the logical positivists, namely semantic instrumentalism, according to which theoretical terms are not to be interpreted as referring to anything, and theoretical reductionism, according to which theoretical terms are disguised ways of referring to observable phenomena. These forms of antirealism rely upon discredited doctrines about scientific language, such as that it can be divided into theoretical and observational parts, and that much of it should not be taken literally. Bas van Fraassen (1980) revitalised the debate about scientific realism by proposing his constructive empiricism as an alternative. His antirealism is sceptical rather than dogmatic, and does not depend on the distinction between theoretical and observational terms. He allows that terms such as ‘sub-atomic particle’ and ‘particle too small to see’ are perfectly meaningful and should be taken literally (note that the former term is theoretical and the latter term is not but both purportedly refer to unobservable entities). On the other hand, he holds that it is perfectly rational to remain agnostic about whether there are any such particles because he argues that to accept the best scientific theories we have only requires believing that they are empirically adequate, in the sense of correctly describing the observable world, rather than believing that they are true simpliciter. (For more on constructive empiricism see Monton 2007.)
How then are we to decide whether to believe in the full theoretical truth of scientific theories, including what they say about unobservable entities such as electrons and black holes, or whether to believe instead merely that our best scientific theories are empirically adequate? Van Fraassen argues that since the latter belief is logically weaker and yet as empirically contentful as the former belief it is natural for an empiricist to go only as far as belief in empirical adequacy. On the other hand, many philosophers are moved by the fact that belief in only the empirical adequacy of our best scientific theories leaves us unable to explain the phenomena that they describe. Inference to the best explanation is widely believed to be an important form of reasoning in science, and the production of explanations of the world is often supposed to be one of the main successes of science. When the target of explanation becomes science itself and its history of empirical success as a whole, we arrive at the no-miracles argument famously presented by Hilary Putnam as follows: “The positive argument for realism is that it is the only philosophy that doesn't make the success of science a miracle” (1975, 73).
The no-miracles argument is elaborated in terms of specific features of scientific methodology and practice. Richard Boyd (1985, for example) argues that in explaining the success of science, we need to explain the overall instrumental success of scientific methods across the history of science. Alan Musgrave (1988) says that the only version of the no-miracles argument that might work is one appealing to the novel predictive success of theories. Some realists, such as Psillos (1999), have gone so far as to argue that only theories which have enjoyed novel predictive success ought to be considered as falling within the scope of arguments for scientific realism.
Colin Howson (2000), P.D. Magnus and Craig Callender (2004), and Peter Lipton (2004) have recently argued that the no-miracles argument is flawed because in order to evaluate the claim that it is probable that theories enjoying empirical success are approximately true we have to know what the relevant base rate is, and there is no way we can know this. Magnus and Callender argue that “wholesale” arguments that are intended to support realism (or antirealism) about science as a whole (rather than “retail” arguments that are applied to a specific theory) are only taken seriously because of our propensity to engage in the ‘base rate fallacy’ of evaluating probabilities without knowing all the relevant information. They think we ought to abandon the attempt to defend scientific realism in general rather than on a case-by-case basis.
When it comes to wholesale arguments against scientific realism, perhaps the most influential until recently was the underdetermination argument, according to which the existence of empirical equivalents to our best scientific theories implies that we should withhold epistemic commitment to them. This is often dismissed by realists as generating doubt about unobservables that is no more worrying than doubting other minds or the external world. They argue that since scientists find ways of choosing between empirically equivalent rivals, philosophers ought not to make too much of merely in-principle possibilities that are irrelevant to scientific practice (see Laudan and Leplin 1991, 1993, and Kukla 1998). (Kyle Stanford (2006) defends an underdetermination argument called ‘the problem of unconceived alternatives’ with reference to the history of science, so perhaps not all underdetermination arguments are a priori and theoretical.)
The power of the arguments against scientific realism from theory change is that, rather than being a priori and theoretical, they are empirically based and their premises are based on data obtained by examining the practice and history of science. Ontological discontinuity in theory change seems to give us grounds not for mere agnosticism but for the positive belief that many central theoretical terms of our best contemporary science will be regarded as non-referring by future science. So-called ‘pessimistic meta-inductions’ about theoretical knowledge take many forms and are probably almost as ancient as scepticism itself. The have the basic form:
Proposition p is widely believed by most contemporary experts, but p is like many other hypotheses that were widely believed by experts in the past and are disbelieved by most contemporary experts. We have as much reason to expect p to befall their fate as not, therefore we should at least suspend judgement about p if not actively disbelieve it.
More precisely, Larry Laudan (1981) gave a very influential argument with the following structure:
- There have been many empirically successful theories in the history of science which have subsequently been rejected and whose theoretical terms do not refer according to our best current theories.
- Our best current theories are no different in kind from those discarded theories and so we have no reason to think they will not ultimately be replaced as well.
So, by induction we have positive reason to expect that our best current theories will be replaced by new theories according to which some of the central theoretical terms of our best current theories do not refer, and hence we should not believe in the approximate truth or the successful reference of the theoretical terms of our best current theories.
The most common realist response to this argument is to restrict realism to theories with some further properties (usually, maturity, and novel predictive success) so as to cut down the inductive base employed in (i) (see Psillos 1996). Moreover Peter Lewis (2001), Marc Lange (2002) and Magnus and Callender (2004) regard the pessimistic meta-induction as a fallacy of probabilistic reasoning. However, there are arguments from theory change that are not probabilistic. Note first that there are several cases of mature theories which enjoyed novel predictive success, notably the ether theory of light and the caloric theory of heat. If their central theoretical terms do not refer, the realist's claim that approximate truth explains empirical success will no longer be enough to establish realism, because we will need some other explanation for the success of the caloric and ether theories. If this will do for these theories then it ought to do for others where we happened to have retained the central theoretical terms, and then we do not need the realist's preferred explanation that such theories are true and successfully refer to unobservable entities.
Laudan's paper was also intended to show that the successful reference of its theoretical terms is not a necessary condition for the novel predictive success of a theory (1981, 45), and there are counter-examples to the no-miracles argument.
- Successful reference of its central theoretical terms is a necessary condition for the approximate truth of a theory.
- There are examples of theories that were mature and had novel predictive success but whose central theoretical terms do not refer.
- So there are examples of theories that were mature and had novel predictive success but which are not approximately true.
- Approximate truth and successful reference of central theoretical terms is not a necessary condition for the novel-predictive success of scientific theories
So, the no-miracles argument is undermined since, if approximate truth and successful reference are not available to be part of the explanation of some theories' novel predictive success, there is no reason to think that the novel predictive success of other theories has to be explained by realism.
There are two common (not necessarily exclusive) responses to this:
(I) Develop an account of reference according to which the abandoned theoretical terms are regarded as successfully referring after all.
Realists developed causal theories of reference to account for continuity of reference for terms like ‘atom’ or ‘electron’, even though the theories about atoms and electrons have undergone significant changes. The difference with the terms ‘ether’ and ‘caloric’ is that they are no longer used in modern science. However, as C.L. Hardin and Alexander Rosenberg (1982) argue, the causal theory of reference may be used to defend the claim that terms like ‘ether’ referred to whatever causes the phenomena responsible for the terms' introduction. This is criticized by Laudan (1984) as making the reference of theoretical terms a trivial matter, since as long as some phenomena prompt the introduction of a term it will automatically successfully refer to whatever is the relevant cause (or causes). Furthermore, this theory radically disconnects what a theorist is talking about from what she thinks she is talking about. For example, Aristotle or Newton could be said to be referring to geodesic motion in a curved spacetime when, respectively, they talked about the natural motion of material objects, and the fall of a body under the effect of the gravitational force.
(II) Restrict realism to those parts of theories that play an essential role in the derivation of subsequently observed (novel) predictions, and then argue that the terms of past theories which are now regarded as non-referring were non-essential and hence that there is no reason to deny that the essential terms in current theories will be retained. Philip Kitcher says that: “[n]o sensible realist should ever want to assert that the idle parts of an individual practice, past or present, are justified by the success of the whole” (1993, 142).
The most detailed and influential response to the argument from theory change is due to Psillos (1999), who combines strategies (I) and (II). Hasok Chang (2002), Kyle Stanford (2002 and 2003), Mohammed Elsamahi (2005) and Timothy Lyons (2006) criticize Psillos's account. Other responses include Kitcher's (1993) model of reference according to which some tokens of theoretical terms refer and others do not. Christina McLeish (2005) criticizes Kitcher's theory by arguing that there are no satisfactory grounds for making the distinction between referring and non-referring tokens. McLeish (2006) argues that abandoned theoretical terms like ‘ether’ partially refer and partially fail to refer. Juha Saatsi (2005) denies premise (a) and claims that there can be approximate truth of the causal roles postulated by a scientific theory without its central terms necessarily successfully referring (see also Chakravartty, 1998).
There is no consensus among those defending standard realism in the face of theory change. The argument from theory change threatens scientific realism because if what science now says is correct, then the ontologies of past scientific theories are far from accurate accounts of the furniture of the world. If that is so even though they were predictively successful, then the success of our best current theories does not mean they have got the nature of the world right either. The structuralist solution to this problem is to give up the attempt to learn about the nature of unobservable entities from science. The metaphysical import of successful scientific theories consists in their giving correct descriptions of the structure of the world. Theories can be very different and yet share all kinds of structure. The task of providing an adequate theory of approximate truth that fits the history of science and directly addresses the problem of ontological continuity has hitherto defeated realists, but a much more tractable problem is to display the structural commonalities between different theories. Hence, a form of realism that is committed only to the structure of theories might not be undermined by theory change.
There are numerous examples of continuity in the mathematical structure of successive scientific theories. Indeed Niels Bohr and others explicitly applied the methodological principle known as the ‘correspondence principle’, according to which quantum-mechanical models ought to mathematically reduce to classical models in the limit of large numbers of particles, or the limit of Planck's constant becoming arbitrarily small. There are many cases in quantum mechanics where the Hamiltonian functions that represent the total energy of mechanical systems imitate those of classical mechanics, but with variables like those that stand for position and momentum replaced by Hermitian operators. Simon Saunders (1993a) discusses the structural continuities between classical and quantum mechanics and also shows how much structure Ptolemaic and Copernican astronomy have in common. Harvey Brown (1993) explains the correspondence between Special Relativity and classical mechanics. Jonathan Bain and John Norton (2001) discuss the structural continuity in descriptions of the electron, as does Angelo Cei (2004). Robert Batterman (2002) discusses many examples of limiting relationships between theories, notably the renormalization group approach to critical phenomena, and the relationship between wave and ray optics. Holger Lyre (2004) extends Worrall's original example of the continuity between wave optics and electromagnetism by considering the relationship between Maxwellian electrodynamics and Quantum Electrodynamics. Saunders (2003c and d) also criticises Tian Cao (1997) for underestimating the difficulties with a non-structuralist form of realism in the light of the history of quantum field theory.
The most minimal form of structuralism focuses on empirical structure, and as such is best thought of as a defence of the cumulative nature of science in the face of Kuhnian worries about revolutions (following Post 1971). See Katherine Brading's and Elaine Landry's (2006) ‘minimal structuralism’, and Otavio Bueno's (1999, 2000) and van Fraassen's (2006, 2007, 2008) structural empiricism (Ryckman 2005 calls the latter “instrumental structuralism”).
Structural realism is often characterised as the view that scientific theories tell us only about the form or structure of the unobservable world and not about its nature. This leaves open the question as to whether the natures of things are posited to be unknowable for some reason or eliminated altogether. Hence, Ladyman (1998) raised the question as to whether Worrall's structural realism is intended as a metaphysical or epistemological modification of standard scientific realism. Worrall's paper is ambiguous in this respect. That he has in mind only an epistemic constraint on realism—commitment to the structure of our best scientific theories but agnosticism about the rest of the content—is suggested by his citation of Poincaré who talks of the redundant theories of the past capturing the “true relations” between the “real objects which Nature will hide forever from our eyes” (1905, 161). So one way of thinking about structural realism is as an epistemological modification of scientific realism to the effect that we only believe what scientific theories tell us about the relations entered into by unobservable objects, and suspend judgement as to the nature of the latter. (ESR is called ‘restrictive structural realism’ by Psillos 2001.) There are various forms this might take.
- We cannot know the individuals that instantiate the structure of the world but we can know their properties and relations.
- We cannot know the individuals or their intrinsic/non-relational properties but we can know their first-order relational properties.
- We cannot know the individuals, their first-order properties or relations, but we can know the second-order structure of their relational properties. Russell (1927) and Carnap (1928) took this extreme view and argued that science only tells us about purely logical features of the world.
Psillos (2001) refers to the “upward path” to structural realism as beginning with empiricist epistemological principles and arriving at structural knowledge of the external world. The “downward” path is to arrive at structural realism by weakening standard scientific realism as suggested by Worrall. Both paths are criticized by Psillos. Russell (1927) was led along the upward path by three epistemological principles: firstly, the claim that we only have direct access to our percepts (Ayer's ‘egocentric predicament’); secondly, the principle that different effects have different causes (which is called the Helmholtz-Weyl Principle by Psillos); and thirdly, that the relations between percepts have the same logico-mathematical structure as the relations between their causes. This led him to the claim that science can only describe the world up to isomorphism, and hence to (3) above since according to him we know only the (second-order) isomorphism class of the structure of the world and not the (first-order) structure itself. Russell's upward path is defended by Votsis (2005).
Mauro Dorato argues for ESR on the grounds that structural realism needs entity realism to be plausible (1999, 4). Most defenders of ESR assume that there must be individual objects and properties that are ontologically prior to relational structure. Matteo Morganti differs from other epistemic structural realists by arguing for agnosticism about whether there is a domain of individuals over and above relational structure.
As mentioned above, Poincaré's structuralism had a Kantian flavour. In particular, he thought that the unobservable entities postulated by scientific theories were Kant's noumena or things in themselves. He revised Kant's view by arguing that the latter can be known indirectly rather than not at all because it is possible to know the relations into which they enter. Poincaré followed the upward path to structural realism, beginning with the neo-Kantian goal of recovering the objective or intersubjective world from the world from the subjective world of private sense impressions: “what we call objective reality is… what is common to many thinking beings and could be common to all; … the harmony of mathematical laws” (1906, 14). However, he also followed the downward path to structural realism arguing that the history of science can be seen as cumulative at the level of relations rather than objects. For example, between Carnot's and Clausius' thermodynamics the ontology changes but the Second Law of Thermodynamics is preserved. While Worrall never directly endorses the Kantian aspect of Poincaré's thought, Zahar's structural realism is explicitly a form of Kantian transcendental idealism according to which science can never tell us more than the structure of the noumenal world; the nature of the entities and properties of which it consists are epistemically inaccessible to us (as in (2) above).
Frank Jackson (1998), Rae Langton (1998) and David Lewis (2009) also advocate views similar to ESR. Jackson refers to ‘Kantian physicalism’ (1998: 23–24), Langton to ‘Kantian Humility’, and Lewis to ‘Ramseyan Humility’. Peter Unger (2001) also argues that our knowledge of the world is purely structural and that qualia are the non-structural components of reality. Jackson argues that science only reveals the causal / relational properties of physical objects, and that “we know next to nothing about the intrinsic nature of the world. We know only its causal cum relational nature” (1998: 24). Langton argues that science only reveals the extrinsic properties of physical objects, and both then argue that their intrinsic natures, and hence the intrinsic nature of the world, are epistemically inaccessible. Jackson points out that this inference can be blocked if the natures of objects and their intrinsic properties are identified with their relational or extrinsic properties, but argues that this makes a mystery of what it is that stands in the causal relations. Lewis' structuralism is based on the centrality he gives to the Ramsey sentence reconstruction of scientific theories that is the subject of the next section.
A position called structural realism, that amounts to an epistemological gloss on traditional scientific realism, was advocated by Grover Maxwell (1962, 1970a, 1970b, 1972). Maxwell wanted to make scientific realism compatible with “concept empiricism” about the meaning of theoretical terms, and he also wanted to explain how we can have epistemic access to unobservable entities. The problem as Maxwell saw it was that theories talk about all sorts of entities and processes with which we are not ‘acquainted’. How, he wondered, can we then know about and refer to them and their properties? The answer that he gave, following Russell, was that we can know about them by description, that is we can know them via their structural properties. In fact, he argues, this is the limit of our knowledge of them, and the meanings of theoretical terms are to be understood purely structurally. The way that Maxwell explicates the idea that the structure of the theory exhausts the cognitive content of its theoretical terms, is to consider the Ramsey sentence of the theory (Ramsey 1929). Ramsey's method allows the elimination of theoretical terms from a theory by replacing them with existentially quantified predicate variables (or names in the case of the influential Lewis 1970). If one replaces the conjunction of assertions of a first-order theory with its Ramsey sentence, the observational consequences of the theory are carried over, but direct reference to unobservables is eliminated.
If we formalise a theory in a first-order language: ∏(O1,…,On;T1,…,Tm), where the Os are the observational terms and the Ts are the theoretical terms, then the corresponding Ramsey sentence is ∃t1,…,tm∏(O1,…,On;t1,…,tm). Thus the Ramsey sentence only asserts that there are some objects, properties and relations that have certain logical features, satisfying certain implicit definitions. It is a higher-order description, but ultimately connects the theoretical content of the theory with observable behaviour. However, it is a mistake to think that the Ramsey sentence allows us to eliminate theoretical entities, for it still states that these exist. It is just that they are referred to not directly, by means of theoretical terms, but by description, that is via variables, connectives, quantifiers and predicate terms whose direct referents are (allegedly) known by acquaintance. Thus Maxwell (and Russell) claimed that knowledge of the unobservable realm is limited to knowledge of its structural rather than intrinsic properties, or, as is sometimes said, limited to knowledge of its higher-order properties. It is arguable that this is the purest structuralism possible, for the notion of structure employed refers to the higher-order properties of a theory, those that are only expressible in purely formal terms.
This is an epistemological structural realism meant to vindicate and not to revise the ontological commitments of scientific realism. On this view the objective world is composed of unobservable objects between which certain properties and relations obtain; but we can only know the properties and relations of these properties and relations, that is, the structure of the objective world. However, there are serious difficulties with this view which were originally raised by Newman in 1928 and which have been recently discussed by Demopoulos and Friedman (1989). The basic problem is that structure is not sufficient to uniquely pick out any relations in the world. Suppose that the world consists of a set of objects whose structure is W with respect to some relation R, about which nothing else is known. Any collection of things can be regarded as having structure W provided there is the right number of them. This is because according to the extensional characterisation of relations defined on a domain of individuals, every relation is identified with some set of subsets of the domain. The power set axiom entails the existence of every such subset and hence every such relation.
As Demopoulos and Friedman point out, if ∏ is consistent, and if all its purely observational consequences are true, then the truth of the corresponding Ramsey sentence follows as a theorem of second-order logic or set theory (provided the initial domain has the right cardinality—and if it does not then consistency implies that there exists one that does). The formal structure of a relation can easily be obtained with any collection of objects provided there are enough of them, so having the formal structure cannot single out a unique referent for this relation; in order to do so we must stipulate that we are talking about the intended relation, which is to go beyond the structural description. “Thus on this view, only cardinality questions are open to discovery!” (1989, 188); everything else will be known a priori.
This leads Demopoulos and Friedman to conclude that reducing a theory to its Ramsey sentence is equivalent to reducing it to its empirical consequences, and thus that: “Russell's realism collapses into a version of phenomenalism or strict empiricism after all: all theories with the same observational consequences will be equally true” (1985, 635). Similarly, Jane English (1973) argued, though on the basis of different considerations, that any two Ramsey sentences that are incompatible with one another cannot have all their observational consequences in common. Hence it seems that if we treat a theory just as its Ramsey sentence then the notion of theoretical equivalence collapses onto that of empirical equivalence. (Demopoulos 2003 argues that similar considerations show that structural empiricism also collapses truth to empirical adequacy; he also discusses the relationship between Newman's problem and Putnam's Paradox. Votsis 2003 argues that the conclusion of the Newman argument doesn't undermine ESR after all. Gordon Solomon 1989 defends Richard Braithwaite's claim that Eddington's structuralism (see 4.1 below) is vulnerable to Newman's argument.)
Jeffery Ketland (2004) argues in detail that the Newman objection trivialises the Ramsey sentence formulation of ESR. Worrall and Zahar (2001) argue that the cognitive content of a theory is exhausted by its Ramsey sentences but that, while the Ramsey sentence only expresses the empirical content of the theory, the notion of empirical content in play here is sufficient for a form of realism. Cruse (2005) and Melia and Saatsi (2006) defend the Ramsey sentence approach against model-theoretic arguments by questioning the assumption that all predicates which apply to unobservables must be eliminated in favour of bound variables. Mixed predicates such as ‘extended’ are those that apply to both observable and unobservable objects. The Newman objection does not go through if mixed predicates are not Ramsified, because a model of the Ramsey sentence will not necessarily be one in which what is claimed regarding the mixed properties and relations holds. In response, Demopoulos (2008) points out that the Ramsey sentence of a theory with mixed predicates where the latter are not Ramsified will be true provided the original theory is satisfied—hence the claim that the content of the Ramsey sentence is merely the observational content of the original theory plus a cardinality claim is still true when mixed predicates are considered. Melia and Saatsi (2006) also argue that intensional notions, such as naturalness and causal significance, may be applied to properties to save the Ramsey sentence formulation of ESR from triviality. (This recalls the defence of Russell's structuralism against Newman discussed in Hochberg 1994.) Demopoulos also raises two problems with this strategy: firstly, even non-natural relations can have significant claims made about them in a theory, and secondly, the cognitive significance of unramsified theories is independent of a commitment to ‘real’ or ‘natural’ relations. Hence, Demopoulos insists that the Ramsey sentence of a theory and the theory itself are importantly different. (See also Psillos 2006b.)
Versions of ESR that employ the Ramsey sentence of a theory and the distinction between observational and theoretical terms are embedded in the so-called syntactic view of theories that adopts first-order quantificational logic as the appropriate form for the representation of physical theories. According to Zahar (1994, 14) the continuity in science is in the intension rather than the extension of its concepts. He argues that if we believe that the mathematical structure of theories is fundamentally important for ontology, then we need a semantics for theories that addresses the representative role of mathematics directly. Such an account of scientific representation is allegedly found in the so-called ‘semantic’ or ‘model-theoretic’ approach associated primarily with Patrick Suppes, Fred Suppe, Ron Giere and Bas van Fraassen (see da Costa and French 2003). The relationship between structuralism and the semantic view is discussed by van Fraassen (1997, 2008). Ladyman (1998), and Ladyman and Ross (2007) argue that the Newman problem does not arise for ontic structural realism since it eschews an extensional understanding of relations.
Ladyman (1998) argues that in general epistemological forms of structural realism do not significantly improve the prospects of standard scientific realism and that hence structural realism should be thought of as metaphysically rather than merely epistemically revisionary. Structural realism is supposed to help with the problem of theory change. As Maxwell himself pointed out, his structural realism is a purely semantic and epistemological theory. The Ramsey sentence picks out exactly the same entities as the original theory. It does not dispense with reference, but it makes that reference a function of the (place of the theoretical terms in the) overall structure of the theory, as manifested in the Ramsey sentence. The problem of ontological discontinuity is left untouched by simply adopting Ramsification. In fact, it seems even worse if contextualism about the meaning of theoretical terms is adopted. Cei and French (2006) and Cruse (2005) also argue, on different grounds, that Ramsification is of no help to the structural realist.
Worrall's position in his 1989 paper is not explicitly an epistemic one, and other comments suggest a different view: “On the structural realist view what Newton really discovered are the relationships between phenomena expressed in the mathematical equations of his theory” (1989, 122). If the continuity in scientific change is of “form or structure”, then perhaps we should abandon commitment to even the putative reference of theories to objects and properties, and account for the success of science in other terms. Others who have contributed to structural realism have more explicitly signalled a significant departure from traditional realist metaphysics. For example, Howard Stein:
[O]ur science comes closest to comprehending ‘the real’, not in its account of ‘substances’ and their kinds, but in its account of the ‘Forms’ which phenomena ‘imitate’ (for ‘Forms’ read ‘theoretical structures’, for ‘imitate’, ‘are represented by’). (1989, 57).
A crude statement of ESR is the claim that all we know is the structure of the relations between things and not the things themselves, and a corresponding crude statement of OSR is the claim that there are no ‘things’ and that structure is all there is (this is called ‘radical structuralism’ by van Fraassen 2006).
OSR has attracted most sympathy among some philosophers of physics and physicists. This is natural since, while Worrall's motivation for introducing structural realism was solely the need for a realist response to the pessimistic meta-induction, French and Ladyman introduced OSR to describe a form of structural realism motivated by two further problems:
- identity and individuality of quantum particles and spacetime points, and entanglement;
- scientific representation, in particular the role of models and idealisations in physics.
Their concern with (a) followed that of many of the pioneers of structuralism in twentieth-century philosophy of science including Cassirer, Eddington and Weyl. (Russell's and Carnap's versions of structuralism were more directly motivated by epistemological and semantic problems than by ontological issues arising from physics.) French did seminal work on the identity and individuality of quantum particles with Michael Redhead (who also wrote a classic paper on theories and models (1980) and later endorsed structural realism as a way of interpreting quantum field theory (1999)). More recently it has become more widespread to advocate OSR as a response to contemporary physics as a whole (for example, see Tegmark 2007). Among others who have defended versions of OSR are Jonathan Bain (2003 and 2004), Michael Esfeld (2004) and Esfeld and Lam (2008), Aharon Kantorovich (2003), Holgar Lyre (2004), Gordon McCabe (2007) and John Stachel (2002 and 2006). Saunders and David Wallace have deployed structuralism to solve the problem of how macroscopic objects with more or less determinate properties can be recovered from the Everett interpretation of quantum states (the so-called preferred basis problem) (Saunders 1993b, 1995, and Wallace 2003). OSR is also further elaborated in Ladyman and Ross (2007). Quantum gravity and structuralism is discussed by an outstanding collection of philosophers and physicists in Rickles, French and Saatsi (2006).
Ontic structural realists argue that what we have learned from contemporary physics is that the nature of space, time and matter are not compatible with standard metaphysical views about the ontological relationship between individuals, intrinsic properties and relations. On the broadest construal OSR is any form of structural realism based on an ontological or metaphysical thesis that inflates the ontological priority of structure and relations. The attempt to make this precise splinters OSR into different forms, and all of the following claims have been advocated by some defenders of OSR at some time:
(1) Eliminativism: there are no individuals (but there is relational structure)
This view is associated with French and Ladyman. The term ‘eliminative structural realism’ comes from Psillos (2001). It is criticised on the grounds that there cannot be relations without relata. This objection has been made by various philosophers including Cao (2003b), Dorato (1999), Psillos (2001, 2006), Busch (2003), Morganti (2004) and Chakravartty (1998, 2003) who says: “one cannot intelligibly subscribe to the reality of relations unless one is also committed to the fact that some things are related” (1998, 399). In other words, the question is, how can you have structure without individuals, or, in particular, how can we talk about a group without talking about the elements of a group? Even many of those sympathetic to the OSR of French and Ladyman have objected that they cannot make sense of the idea of relations without relata (see 2004, Esfeld and Lam 2008, Lyre 2004, and Stachel 2006).
However, there are at least two ways to make sense of the idea of a relation without relata:
(I) The idea of a universal. For example, when we refer to the relation referred to by ‘larger than’, it is because we have an interest in its formal properties that are independent of the contingencies of its instantiation. To say that all that there is are relations and no relata, is perhaps to follow Plato and say that the world of appearances is not properly thought of as part of the content of knowledge. (See Esfeld and Lam 2008: 5, and the opening epigram in Psillos 2006.) This Platonic version of OSR is perhaps what Howard Stein has in mind:
… if one examines carefully how phenomena are ‘represented’ by the quantum theory… then… interpretation in terms of ‘entities’ and ‘attributes’ can be seen to be highly dubious… I think the live problems concern the relation of the Forms … to phenomena, rather than the relation of (putative) attributes to (putative) entities … (Stein 1989, 59).
(II) The relata of a given relation always turn out to be relational structures themselves on further analysis. As Stachel puts it, “it's relations all the way down” (although he denies the claim, 2006). See, Ladyman and Ross (2007) and Saunders (2003d, 129). The idea that there may be no fundamental level to reality is discussed in Schaffer (2003).
In any case, eliminativism does not require that there be relations without relata, just that the relata not be individuals. French and Krause (2006) argue that quantum particles and spacetime points are not individuals but that they are objects in a minimal sense, and they develop a non-classical logic according to which such non-individual objects can be the values of first-order variables, but ones for which the law of identity, ‘for all x, x is identical to x’, does not hold (but neither does ‘x is not identical to x’). There is no unanimity about the difference between individuals, objects and entities among philosophers but one neutral way of putting the issue is to ask whether there are only individual objects in the logical sense of object as the value of a first-order variable, or whether there are individuals in some more substantive sense (for example, being subject to laws of identity, or being substances).
(2) There are relations (or relational facts) that do not supervene on the intrinsic and spatio-temporal properties of their relata.
The interpretation of entangled states in quantum mechanics in terms of strongly non-supervenient relations goes back to Cleland (1984). However, the idea that there could be relations which do not supervene on the non-relational properties of their relata runs counter to a deeply entrenched way of thinking among some philosophers. The standard conception of structure is either set theoretic or logical. Either way it is often assumed that a structure is fundamentally composed of individuals and their intrinsic properties, on which all relational structure supervenes. The view that this conceptual structure reflects the structure of the world is called “particularism” by Paul Teller (1989) and “exclusive monadism” by Dipert (1997). It has been and is endorsed by many philosophers, including, for example, Aristotle and Leibniz.
Spatio-temporal relations are often exempted from this prescription since the idea that the position of an object is intrinsic to it is associated with a very strong form of substantivalism. Hence, the standard view is that the relations between individuals other than their spatio-temporal relations supervene on the intrinsic properties of the relata and their spatio-temporal relations. This is David Lewis's Humean supervenience:
[A]ll there is to the world is a vast mosaic of local matters of particular fact, just one little thing and then another … We have geometry: a system of external relations of spatio temporal distance between points (of spacetime, point matter, aether or fields or both). And at these points we have local qualities: perfectly natural intrinsic properties which need nothing bigger than a point at which to be instantiated … All else supervenes on that (1986, x).
Tim Maudlin argues against Lewis's Humean Supervenience on the basis of quantum entanglement and argues that this means the end of ontological reductionism, and abandoning the combinatorial conception of reality that comes from thinking of the world as made of building blocks, each of which exists independently of the others (1998, 59) and: “The world is not just a set of separately existing localized objects, externally related only by space and time” (60). Similarly, advocates of OSR such as Esfeld, French and Ladyman emphasise that the non-supervenient relations implied by quantum entanglement undermine the ontological priority conferred on individuals in most traditional metaphysics. Some relations are at least ontologically on a par with individuals so that either relations are ontologically primary or neither is ontologically primary or secondary. (Esfeld 2004 and Oliver Pooley 2006 hold the latter view but Esfeld goes further and claims that if there are intrinsic properties they are ontologically secondary and derivative of relational properties (see below).)
(3) Individual objects have no intrinsic natures.
On this view, individual objects of a particular kind are qualitatively identical. They are not individuated by an haecceity or primitive thisness. Classical particles can be and often are so regarded. Classical particles could be so regarded because if a principle of impenetrability is adhered to, no two such particles ever have all the same spatio-temporal properties. The bundle theory of individuation was developed by empiricists to account for the individuation of physical objects while only quantifying over properties that are within the reach of natural science. This is a standard metaphysical position that implies nothing so radical as any version of OSR. Its interest lies in the fact that on this view it would seem that the Principle of the Identity of Indiscernibles (PII), restricted so that identity involving properties are not in its scope, must be true. If so there are some properties (perhaps including spatio-temporal properties) that distinguish each thing from every other thing, and the identity and individuality of physical objects can be reduced to other facts about them.
The problem is with Quantum Mechanics for it seems there are entangled quantum states of many particles that attribute exactly the same intrinsic and relational properties to each of them. For example, the famous singlet state of two fermions, such as electrons, attributes to the pair the relation that their spins in any given direction are opposite to each other, but does not attribute a definite spin in any direction to either particle alone. Given that they may also be attributed exactly the same spatial wavefunction, as when they are both in the first orbit of an atom, for example, then such particles would seem to violate PII. This leads to a dilemma that was articulated by Steven French and Michael Redhead (1988); either quantum particles are not individuals, or they are individuals but the principle of individuation that applies to them must make reference to some kind of empirically transcendent haecceity, bare particularity or the like.
Saunders argues that there is no underdetermination (see (5) below). The appeal to this metaphysical underdetermination is criticised by Chakravartty 2003, who argues that it cannot be significant since it also obtains in the case of everyday objects. Morganti (2004) argues in favour of transcendental individuation, and also points out that if quantum mechanics is not complete and there are hidden variables as in Bohm theory, the quantum particles may be individuated by their intrinsic and spatio-temporal properties after all.
(4) There are individual entities but they don't have any irreducible intrinsic properties.
Michael Esfeld (2004) rejects (1) and claims that:
(a) relations require relata
but denies that:
(b) these things must have intrinsic properties over and above the relations in which they stand.
As mentioned above Esfeld holds that there are things and relations but neither is ontologically primary or secondary. On this view, all the properties of individual objects are relations to other objects. This view is called ‘moderate structural realism’ by Esfeld (and Esfeld and Lam 2008). It avoids the problems with (1) above, and incorporates (2) and (3). Any version of (4) that is combined with (3) arguably makes individual entities ontologically dependent on relational structure (see (6) below).
Benacerraf (1965) argues that there cannot be objects possessing only structural properties. The idea of such objects is denounced as ‘mysticism’ by Dummett (1991), and criticised in the context of structural realism by Busch (2003). These objections go back to Russell:
…it is impossible that the ordinals should be, as Dedekind suggests, nothing but the terms of such relations as constitute a progression. If they are to be anything at all, they must be intrinsically something; they must differ from other entities as points from instants, or colours from sounds. What Dedekind intended to indicate was probably a definition by means of the principle of abstraction…But a definition so made always indicates some class of entities having… a genuine nature of their own (1903, p. 249).
On the other hand, D.W. Mertz (1996) defends ‘network instance realism’ and rejects the ‘tyranny of the monadic’ arguing that individuated relation instances are ontologically fundamental.
(5) Facts about the identity and diversity of objects are ontologically dependent on the relational structures of which they are part.
Saunders (2003a, 2003b and 2006) argues that there is a weakened form of PII (discussed by Quine 1976) that is satisfied even by electrons in the singlet state described above. The notion of ‘weak discernibility’ applies to objects that satisfy some irreflexive relation (a relation such that xRx does not obtain for every x). The relation of having opposite spin that is had by electrons in the singlet state is clearly such an irreflexive relation and Saunders argues that, since by Leibniz's law, the holding of an irreflexive relation aRb entails the existence of distinct relata a and b, then the electrons are individuals, even though in so far as they are individuals it is the relations among them that account for this.
This runs counter to the usual way of thinking according to which there are individuals in spacetime whose existence is independent of each other and that facts about the identity and diversity of these individuals are determined independently of their relations to each other (Stachel 2006 calls this ‘intrinsic individuality’). It is widely held that relations between individuals cannot individuate those same individuals: “relations presuppose numerical diversity and so cannot account for it”. The argument is that without distinct individuals that are metaphysically prior to the relations, there is nothing to stand in the irreflexive relations that are supposed to confer individuality on the relata. The issue was famously discussed by Russell (1911), and see also MacBride (2006). Ladyman and Ross (2007), Saunders (2006) and Stachel (2006) argue that facts about the identity and diversity of fermions are not intrinsic obtain only in virtue of the relations into which they enter. On this view the individuality of quantum particles is ontologically on a par with, or secondary to the relational structure of which they are parts. Stachel (2006) calls this ‘contextual individuality’ and he extends this to spacetime points (see 4.3 below).
Leitgeb and Ladyman (2008) note that in the case of mathematical structures there is nothing to rule out the possibility that the identity and diversity of objects in a structure is a primitive feature of the structure as a whole that is not accounted for by any other facts about it. Ladyman (2007) also discusses such primitive contextual individuality. One important question so far not discussed is whether on the contextualist view the identity and diversity of the objects depends on the whole structure or just part of it.
(6) There are no subsistent objects and relational structure is ontologically subsistent.
This claim is associated with quantum holism and holism more generally (see Horgan and Potrc 2000 and 2002). As mentioned above this is arguably implied by the conjunction of (3) and (4), and also by (5). The basic idea of ontological subsistence is that of being able to exist without anything else existing. The notions of ontological dependence and ontological subsistence are often employed in discussions of structuralism but are in need of clarification (see Linnebo 2008).
(7) Individual objects are constructs
French (1999) and French and Ladyman (2003a) maintain that individuals have only a heuristic role. Poincaré similarly argued that “the gross matter which is furnished us by our sensations was but a crutch for our infirmity” (1898, 41). Ladyman and Ross (2007) argue that objects are pragmatic devices used by agents to orient themselves in regions of spacetime, and to construct approximate representations of the world. Anyone who defends eliminativism as in (1) above must similarly offer a non-ad hoc account of the point and value of reference to and generalization over objects in science. For example, cognitive science may show that we are not able to think about certain domains without hypostatising individuals as the bearers of structure. This is as yet mere speculation and a subject for further study.
Group theory was first developed to describe symmetry. A symmetry is a transformation of some structure or object which leaves it unchanged in some respect. A group of symmetry transformations is a mathematical object which consists of the set of transformations, including the identity transformation and the inverse of each transformation, and the operation of composing them, where the result of two composed transformations is itself in the original set. Mathematical objects can be characterised in terms of which symmetry transformations leave them unchanged or invariant.
The founders of structuralism shared an appreciation of the importance of group theory in the ontology of physics. Cassirer held that the possibility of talking of ‘objects’ in a context is the possibility of individuating invariants (1944). Similarly, Max Born says: “Invariants are the concepts of which science speaks in the same way as ordinary language speaks of ‘things’, and which it provides with names as if they were ordinary things” (1953, 149), and: “The feature which suggests reality is always some kind of invariance of a structure independent of the aspect, the projection” (149). He goes so far as to say: “I think the idea of invariant is the clue to a relational concept of reality, not only in physics but in every aspect of the world.” (144). Eddington says: “What sort of thing is it that I know? The answer is structure. To be quite precise it is structure of the kind defined and investigated in the mathematical theory of groups” (1939, 147). Poincaré understands group structure in Kantian terms as a pure form of the understanding.
The idea then is that we have various representations of some physical structure which may be transformed or translated into one another, and then we have an invariant state under such transformations which represents the objective state of affairs. The group structure is primary and the group representations constructed from this structure have a derivative status. Representations are extraneous to physical states but they allow our empirical knowledge of them. Objects are picked out by the identification of invariants with respect to the transformations relevant to the context. Thus, on this view, elementary particles are hypostatisations of sets of quantities that are invariant under the symmetry groups of particle physics.
For example, one of the most fundamental distinctions between kinds of particles is that between fermions and bosons. This was described group theoretically by Weyl and Wigner in terms of the group of permutations, and the former's approach to relativity theory was similarly group-theoretic. In the case of quantum mechanics Weyl asserts that: “All quantum numbers, with the exception of the so-called principal quantum number, are indices characterising representations of groups.” (1931, xxi) The central point of philosophical relevance here is that the mathematical idea of invariance is taken by Weyl to characterise the notion of objectivity. It is this that liberates physics from the parochial confines of a particular coordinate system. For Weyl appearances are open only to intuition (in the Kantian sense of subjective perception) and therefore agreement is obtained by giving objective status only to those relations that are invariant under particular transformations.
Weyl's views have recently been revived by Sunny Auyang (1995) in an explicitly neo-Kantian project which attempts to solve the problem of objectivity in quantum mechanics and quantum field theory. Auyang seeks to extract the “primitive conceptual structure” in physical theories and she too finds it in what she calls the “representation-transformation-invariant structure”. This is essentially group-theoretic structure. Auyang, like Born and Weyl, thinks that such invariant structure under transformations is what separates an objective state of affairs from its various representations, or manifestations to observers under different perceptual conditions. According to her events are individuated structurally.
Ryckman (2005) describes the history of relativity theory and Weyl's role in it. Ryckman argues that the work of Eddington and Weyl was profoundly influenced by the phenomenology of Husserl. The latter also seems to have understood objectivity in terms of invariance. (Ryckman calls Kantian structural realism “transcendental structuralism”. OSR is what he calls ‘transcendent structuralism’.) Group theory in the development of structuralism deserves further historical analysis. It played a crucial role in epistemological reflections on geometry in relation to Klein's Erlanger programme (Birkhoff and Bennett 1988). French (1998, 1999, 2000) and Castellani (1998) have explored the ontological representation of the fundamental objects of physics in terms of sets of group-theoretic invariants by Cassirer, Eddington, Schrödinger, Weyl, Wigner, Piron, Jauch and others.
Cassirer rejected the Aristotelian idea of individual substances on the basis of physics, and argued that the metaphysical view of the ‘material point’ as an individual object cannot be sustained in the context of field theory. He offers a structuralist conception of the field:
The field is not a ‘thing’, it is a system of effects (Wirkungen), and from this system no individual element can be isolated and retained as permanent, as being ‘identical with itself’ through the course of time. The individual electron no longer has any substantiality in the sense that it per se est et per se concipitur; it ‘exists’ only in its relation to the field, as a ‘singular location’ in it (1936, 178).
In gauge quantum field theories, which are our best contemporary physical theories of all the forces other than gravity, each theory is associated with a different symmetry group, and the unification of theories was achieved by looking for theoretical structures with the relevant combined symmetry. (For example, the unitary group U(1) for quantum electrodynamics, the 'special' unitary group SU(2) for the theory of the weak interaction, and SU(2) × U(1)/Z2 for the unified electroweak theory.) Lyre argues for OSR in the interpretation of quantum field theory. He argues that “the traditional picture of spatiotemporally fixed object-like entities is undermined by the ontology of gauge theories in various ways and that main problems with traditional scientific realism…can be softened by a commitment to the structural content of gauge theories, in particular to gauge symmetry groups” (2004, 666). He goes on to note that his favoured interpretation of gauge theories (in terms of non-separable holonomies) is one according to which the fundamental objects are ontologically secondary to structure because the objects of a theory are members of equivalence classes under symmetry transformations and no further individuation of objects is possible. Similarly, Kantorovich (2003) argues that the symmetries of the strong force are ontologically prior to the particles that feel that force, namely the hadrons, and likewise for the symmetries of the so-called ‘grand unification’ of particle physics in the standard model. Cao in his book on quantum field theory sometimes sounds like an ontic structural realist, because he denies that the structures postulated by field theories must be “ontologically supported by unobservable entities” (Cao 1997, 5). Elsewhere (2003) he explicitly criticises OSR.
Critics of OSR may argue that the claim of metaphysical underdetermination in the case of non-relativistic many particle quantum mechanics is resolved by the shift to quantum field theory. This is especially plausible when it comes to quantum field theory in a curved spacetime since in that context, “a useful particle interpretation of states does not, in general, exist” (Wald 1984, 47, quoted in Stachel 2006, 58). See also Malament (1996) and Clifton and Halvorson (2002), who show that there is a fundamental conflict between relativistic quantum field theory and the existence of localisable particles.
Field quantities are usually attributed to space-time points or regions. The problem of individuality now concerns whether fields themselves are individuals, or whether they are the properties of spacetime points. In the latter case the problem becomes whether the spacetime points are individuals. This last question is bound up with the debate about substantivalism in the foundations of General Relativity.
There has been much dispute about whether General Relativity supports relationism or substantivalism about spacetime. The main problem for the latter is the general covariance of the field equations of General Relativity: any spacetime model and its image under a diffeomorphism (a infinitely differentiable, one-one and onto mapping of the model to itself) are in all observable respects equivalent to one another; all physical properties are expressed in terms of generally covariant relationships between geometrical objects. In other words, since the points of spacetime are entirely indiscernible one from another, it makes no difference if we swap their properties around so long as the overall structure remains the same. This is made more apparent by the so-called ‘hole argument’ which shows that if diffeomorphic models are regarded as physically distinct then there is a breakdown of determinism. Substantivalists cannot just bite the bullet and accept this since, as John Earman and John Norton (1987) argue, the question of determinism ought to be settled on empirical/physical grounds and not a priori ones.
There have been a variety of responses to this problem. Lewis (1986) and Carol Brighouse (1994) suggest accepting haecceitism about spacetime points, but argue that it should not worry us that haecceitistic determinism, that is determinism with respect to which points end up with which metrical properties, fails. Melia (1999) also criticises the notion of determinism employed by Earman and Norton. Nonetheless most philosophers of physics seem to have concluded that if spacetime points do have primitive identity then the substantivalist who is committed to them must regard the failure of haecceitistic determinism as a genuine failure of determinism. Hence, others have sought to modify the substantivalism.
Robert DiSalle (1994) suggests that the correct response to the hole argument is that the structure of spacetime be accepted as existent despite its failure to supervene on the reality of spacetime points. A similar view has been proposed by Carl Hoefer, who argues that the problems for spacetime substantivalism turn on the “ascription of primitive identity to space-time points” (1996, 11). Hence, it seems that the insistence on interpreting spacetime in terms of an ontology of underlying entities and their properties is what causes the problems for realism about spacetime. This is a restatement of the position developed by Stein (1968) in his famous exchange with Grünbaum, according to which spacetime is neither a substance, not a set of relations between substances, but a structure in its own right. Similarly, Oliver Pooley (2007) argues that eliminativism about individual spacetime points can be avoided without any tension with General Relativity, if it is accepted that the facts about their identity and diversity is grounded in relations they bear to each other. His sophisticated substantivalism allows that spacetime points be individuated relationally and not independently of the metric field. This means embracing contextual individuality grounded in relational structure. See also Cassirer who says: “To such a [spacetime] point also no being in itself can be ascribed; it is constituted by a definite aggregate of relations and consists in this aggregate.” (1936, 195)
The analogy between the debate about substantivalism, and the debate about whether quantum particles are individuals was first explicitly made by Ladyman (1998), but others such as Stachel (2002) and Saunders (2003a and 2003b) have elaborated it. However, Pooley (2006) argues that there is no such analogy, or at least not a very deep one, in part because he thinks that there is no metaphysical underdetermination in GR. According to him the standard formulations of the theory are ontologically committed to the metric field, and the latter is most naturally interpreted as representing “spacetime structure” (8).
Others who have discussed structural realism and spacetime include, Dorato (2000) who discusses spacetime and structural realism but rejects OSR, Esfeld and Lam (2008) who argue for moderate ontic structural realism about spacetime, and Bain (2003), who says that: “Conformal structure, for instance, can be realised on many different types of ‘individuals’: manifold points, twisters or multivectors …What is real, the spacetime structuralist will claim, is the structure itself and not the manner in which alternative formalisms instantiate it” (25).
(1) Structural realism collapses into standard realism
Psillos (1995) argues that any form of structural realism must presuppose a distinction between the form and content of a theory, and/or a distinction between our ability to know the structure and our ability to know the nature of the world. Both these distinctions are illusory according to Psillos because the scientific revolution banished mysterious forms and substances that might not be fully describable in structural terms. For Psillos, properties in mature science are defined by the laws in which they feature, and “the nature and the structure of a physical entity form a continuum” (1995). Hence, for Psillos, structural realism is either false or collapses into traditional realism. (This is the response of Richard Braithwaite (1940, 463) to Eddington's structuralism.) Similarly, David Papineau argues that “restriction of belief to structural claims is in fact no restriction at all” (Papineau 1996, 12), hence structural realism gains no advantage over traditional realism with the problem of theory change because it fails to make any distinction between parts of theories that should and should not enjoy our ontological commitment. Kyle Stanford (2003, 570) also argues that we cannot distinguish the structural claims of theories from their claims about content or natures.
(2) Isn't structure also lost in theory change?
Many people's first response to structural realism is to point out that mathematical structure is often lost in theory change too (see, for example, Chakravartty 2004, 164, Stanford 2003, 570–572). The realist is claiming that we ought to believe what our best scientific theories say about the furniture of the world in the face of the fact that we have inductive grounds for believing this will be radically revised, whereas the structural realist is only claiming that theories represent the relations among, or structure of, the phenomena and in most scientific revolutions the empirical content of the old theory is recovered as a limiting case of the new theory. As Post claimed, there simply are no ‘Kuhn-losses’, in the sense of successor theories losing all or part of the well confirmed empirical structures of their predecessors (1971, 229). In sum, we know that well-confirmed relations among phenomena must be retained by future theories. This goes beyond mere belief in the empirical adequacy of our theories if we suppose that the relations in question are genuine modal relations rather than extensional generalizations about concrete actual phenomena.
(3) Structural realism is too metaphysically revisionary
The considerations from physics do not logically compel us to abandon the idea of a world of distinct ontologically subsistent individuals with intrinsic properties. The identity and individuality of quantum particles could be grounded in each having a primitive thisness, and the same could be true of spacetime points. Physics does seem to tell us that certain aspects of such a world would be unknowable. The epistemic structural realist thinks that all we can know is structure, but it is the structure of an unknowable realm of individuals. An epistemic structural realist may insist in a Kantian spirit that there being such objects is a necessary condition for our empirical knowledge of the world. It may be argued that it is impossible to conceive of relational structures without making models of them in terms of domains of individuals. Certainly, the structuralist faces a challenge in articulating her views to contemporary philosophers schooled in modern logic and set theory, which retains the classical framework of individual objects, and where a structure is just a particular set, namely a set of objects, and a set of relations, where the latter are thought of extensionally as just sets of ordered pairs (or more generally n-tuples in the case of n-place relations).
Psillos (2001) argues that OSR is not ‘worked out’ as a metaphysics, and that a strong burden of proof is on those who would abandon traditional metaphysics (see also Chakravartty (2004). However, it is far from clear that OSR's rivals are ‘worked out’ in any sense that OSR isn't. There in no general agreement among philosophers that any of the metaphysical theories of, say, universals is adequate, and arguably metaphysical categories inherited from the ancient Greeks are not appropriate for contemporary science. Naturalists argue that we should reject metaphysical doctrines if they are not supported by science. Michael Esfeld (2004, 614–616) argues against any gap between epistemology and metaphysics. Similarly Ladyman and Ross (2007) argue for a kind of verificationism in metaphysics.
In sum, structuralists may agree with what Ernan McMullin says:
[I]maginability must not be made the test for ontology. The realist claim is that the scientist is discovering the structures of the world; it is not required in addition that these structures be imaginable in the categories of the macroworld. (1984, 14)
(4) Structuralists can't account for causation
Busch (2003), Psillos (2006a) and Chakravartty (2003) all argue that individual objects are central to productive rather than Humean conceptions of causation and hence to any genuine explanation of change. Objects it is alleged provide the ‘active principle’ of change and causation. French (2006) replies to this charge invoking the idea of Ladyman (1998 and 2004) and French and Ladyman (2003) of modal structure, by which is meant the relationships among phenomena that pertain to necessity, possibility, potentiality, and probability. Ladyman and Ross (2007) defend a version of OSR according to which science describes the objective modal structure of the world, where the latter is ontologically fundamental, in the sense of not supervening on the intrinsic properties of a set of individuals. They argue that causal structure is the pragmatically essential proxy for it in the special sciences (but not necessarily in fundamental physics). (Ladyman (2008) considers the causal exclusion argument in this context.) The structure of dispositions described by Mumford (2004) and Psillos's (2003) idea of nomological structure are cognate to the idea of modal structure. Giere (1986) first suggested that a form of structural realism was the result of conjoining modal realism with constructive empiricism.
(5) Without positing knowledge of individual objects we cannot explain why certain properties and relations tend to cohere.
This objection is due to Chakravartty (2003) who points out that certain properties tend to be found together, for example, negative charge and a certain rest mass, and then asks ‘coincidence or object?’. French (2006) replies arguing that for a structuralist objects just are literally coincidences and nothing more. Once again the challenge for the critic of structuralism is to show that more than the minimal logical notion of an object is required.
(6) Structural realism only applies to physics.
Gower (2000) argues that structural realism seems less natural a position when applied to theories from outside of physics. Mark Newman (2005) argues that structural realism only applies to the mathematical sciences in therefore cannot account for retention of theoretical commitments across theory change in, for example, biology. On the other hand, Harold Kincaid (2008) and Ross (2008) defend structural realist approaches to the social sciences, as do Ladyman and Ross (2007).
(7) Structural Realism collapses the distinction between the mathematical and the physical
Many structuralists are motivated by the thought that if mathematics describes its domain only up to isomorphism, if in other words, it only describes the structure of the domain, once the scientific description of the world becomes largely mathematical, then scientific knowledge too becomes structural knowledge. However, it may then be argued that if only the structure of mathematical theories is relevant to ontology in mathematics, and only structural aspects of the mathematical formalism of physical theories are relevant to ontology in physics, then there is nothing to distinguish physical and mathematical structure. Van Fraassen argues that the heart of the problem with OSR is this:
It must imply: what has looked like the structure of something with unknown qualitative features is actually all there is to nature. But with this, the contrast between structure and what is not structure has disappeared. Thus, from the point of view of one who adopts this position, any difference between it and ‘ordinary’ scientific realism also disappears. It seems then that, once adopted, it is not be called structuralism at all! For if there is no non-structure, there is no structure either. But for those who do not adopt the view, it remains startling: from an external or prior point of view, it seems to tell us that nature needs to be entirely re-conceived. (2006, pp. 292-293)
The essence of van Fraassen's objection here is that the difference between mathematical (uninstantiated/abstract) structure, and physical (instantiated/concrete) structure cannot itself be explained in purely structural terms. There is an analogy here with the theory of universals and the problem of exemplification.
A similar complaint is made by Cao (2003). Saunders (2003d) points out that there is no reason to think that ontic structural realists are committed to the idea that the structure of the world is mathematical. Ladyman and Ross (2007) argue that no account can be given of what makes the world-structure physical and not mathematical. On the other hand, Tegmark (2007) explicitly embraces a Pythagorean form of OSR.
There are two versions of mathematical structuralism: a realist view according to which mathematical structures exist independently of their concrete instantiations; and an eliminativist position according to which statements about mathematical structures are disguised generalisations about their instantiations that exemplify them (see Shapiro 1997, 149–50.) For an excellent survey see Reck and Price (2000). The most well known advocates of realist structuralism in the philosophy of mathematics are Parsons (1990), Resnik (1997) and Shapiro (1997). Recent critiques include Hellman (2005) and MacBride (2005). The relationship between ontic structural realism and ante rem structuralism has been explored by Psillos (2006a), Busch (2003), French (2006), Pooley (2006a), Leitgeb and Ladyman (2008), Ladyman (2007)
Informational structural realism in the context of the foundations of computer science is defended by Floridi (2008). Structuralism has also become popular in metaphysics recently in the form of causal essentialism. This is the doctrine that the causal relations that properties bear to other properties exhaust their natures. See Shoemaker (1980) and Hawthorne (2001). Steven Mumford (2004) adopts a structuralist theory of properties. Alexander Bird's (2007) theory of dispositions is in some ways structuralist. Anjan Chakravartty's (2007) deploys dispositional essentialism in the defence of scientific realism. Michael Esfeld (forthcoming) discusses structuralism about powers. Finally, Verity Harte (2002) discusses an interesting Platonic form of structuralism.
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The author is very grateful for comments on previous drafts of this entry to Ralf Bader, Katherine Brading, Jacob Busch, Anjan Chakravartty, Michael Esfeld, Katherine Hawley, Steven French, Øystein Linnebo, and Stathis Psillos. The editors would like to thank Christopher von Bülow and Gintautas Miliauskas for carefully reading this entry and identifying numerous typographical errors.