Religious Diversity (Pluralism)
With respect to many, if not most issues, there exist significant differences of opinion among individuals who seem to be equally knowledgeable and sincere. Individuals who apparently have access to the same information and are equally interested in the truth affirm incompatible perspectives on, for instance, significant social, political, and economic issues. Such diversity of opinion, though, is nowhere more evident than in the area of religious thought. On almost every religious issue, honest, knowledgeable people hold significantly diverse, often incompatible beliefs.
Religious diversity of this sort can fruitfully be explored in many ways — for instance, from psychological, anthropological, or historical perspectives. The current discussion, however, will concern itself primarily with those key issues surrounding religious diversity with which philosophers, especially analytic philosophers of religion, are most concerned at present. Specifically, our discussion will focus primarily on the following questions: How pervasive is religious diversity? Does the reality of this diversity require a response? Can a person who acknowledges religious diversity remain justified in claiming just one perspective to be correct? If so, is it morally justifiable to attempt to convert others to a different perspective? Can it justifiably be claimed that only one religion offers a path into the eternal presence of God? The answers to such questions are not simply academic. They increasingly have great impact on how we treat others, both personally and corporately.
- 1. The Pervasiveness of Religious Diversity
- 2. Possible Responses to Religious Diversity
- 3. Religious Diversity and Epistemic Obligation
- 4. Religious Diversity and Justified Belief
- 5. Religious Diversity and Apologetics
- 6. Religious Diversity and Religious Tolerance
- 7. Religious Diversity and the Eternal Destiny of Humankind
- 8. Religious Diversity and Public Education
- 9. Conclusion
- Academic Tools
- Other Internet Resources
- Related Entries
Religious diversity exists in a striking way between religions that are theistic and those that are not. For instance, the monotheistic religions Judaism, Christianity, and Islam agree that there is a sole God. Hinduism, by contrast, typically recognizes many gods and goddesses, although some varieties of Hinduism, which count these many deities as aspects of a single God, may be monotheistic. Other strands of Hinduism are henotheistic, worshiping one deity but recognizing many others. Another striking difference between religions has to do with views of the human person. Within many forms of Christianity and Islam, for example, the ultimate goal is subjective immortality in God's presence, while within some forms of Eastern thought, for example, Theravada Buddhism, an important goal is to understand that there is no essential self. However, significant, widespread diversity also exists within basic theistic systems. For example, within Christianity, believers differ significantly on the nature of God. Some see God as all-controlling, others as self-limiting, and still others as incapable in principle of unilaterally controlling any aspect of reality. Some believe God to have infallible knowledge only of all that has occurred or is occurring, others claim God also has knowledge of all that will actually occur, while those who believe God possesses middle knowledge add that God knows all that would actually occur in any possible context. Some believe the moral principles stipulated by God for correct human behavior flow from God's nature and thus that such principles determine God's behavior, while others believe that God acts in accordance with a different set of moral rules, that for God what is right is simply whatever God does. Some believe that only those who have consciously “given their lives to Christ” will spend eternity in God's presence. Others believe that many who have never even heard the name of Jesus will enter God's presence, while others yet do not even believe subjective immortality (a conscious afterlife) to be a reality. Muslims also differ significantly among themselves on these same divine attributes. Or consider the wide variety of Muslim perspectives on such issues as the autonomy of the individual when interpreting the Qur'an, how best to apply core Islamic values to modern life, and the status of women.
While it is still somewhat popular in philosophical circles today to focus on diversity among basic theistic systems, there is a growing awareness that the same basic questions (and responses) that apply to inter-system diversity (for example, to differing perspectives on the most accurate basic theistic conception of God) apply just as clearly, and in exactly the same sense, to intra-system diversity (for example, to differing perspectives within Christianity over the extent of God's knowledge). And there is increasing awareness that the practical import of intra-theistic diversity is just as significant as is that of inter-theistic diversity. For most Christians, for instance, the practical significance of retaining or modifying beliefs about God's power or knowledge is just as great as retaining or modifying the belief that Christianity is a better theistic explanatory hypothesis than is Islam (Basinger 2002, 2–3).
One obvious response to religious diversity is to maintain that since there exists no divine reality — since the referent in all religious truth claims related to the divine is nonexistent — all such claims are false. Another possible response, put forth by religious relativists, is that there is no one truth when considering mutually incompatible religious claims about reality; more than one of the conflicting sets of specific truth-claims can be correct (Runzo 1988, 351–357). However, most current discussions of religious diversity presuppose a realist theory of truth — that there is a truth to the matter.
When the topic is approached in this way, philosophers normally center discussions of religious truth claims on three basic categories: religious exclusivism, religious nonexclusivism, and religious pluralism. For the purpose of our discussion, someone is a religious exclusivist with respect to a given issue when she believes the religious perspective of only one basic theistic system (for instance, only one of the major world religions) or only one of the variants within a basic theistic system (for instance, within Christianity) to be the truth or at least closer to the truth than any other religious perspective on this issue. Someone is a religious non-exclusivist with respect to a given issue when she denies that the religious perspective of any basic theistic system or variant thereof is superior to all other religious perspectives on this issue. And someone is a religious pluralist with respect to a given issue when she claims not only (as a non-exclusivist) that no specific religious perspective is superior but also makes the positive claim that the religious perspectives of more than one basic theistic system or variant thereof are equally close to the truth.
No philosopher denies that the awareness of (realization of) seeming religious diversity sometimes does in fact have an impact on an exclusivist — from causing minor uneasiness to significantly reducing her level of confidence in the truth of certain beliefs to precipitating belief abandonment. This is simply an empirical claim about psychological states and behaviors (Alston 1988, 442–446; Plantinga 2000, 189).
How should, though, an exclusivist coming to an awareness of religious diversity — the awareness that seemingly sincere, knowledgeable individuals differ with her on an issue of religious significance — respond to the reality of such diversity? How should, for instance, the devout Buddhist or Hindu or Christian who comes to realize that others who seem as knowledgeable and devout hold incompatible religious perspectives respond? Or how should the Christian who believes the Bible clearly portrays a God with total control over all aspects of reality respond to the realization that other seemingly sincere, devout, “Bible-believing” Christians see the Bible as clearly portraying a God who has chosen not to control what occurs in those contexts in which humans have been granted meaningful moral freedom? Can an exclusivist justifiably disregard such diversity? If not, is the exclusivist under some obligation to attempt to resolve such epistemic conflicts — engage in belief assessment? Or would it at least be a good idea for her to do so?
Philosophers continue to differ significantly on which response is correct. There are, of course, religious individuals (and groups) who believe it is inappropriate to subject religious beliefs to assessment of any sort. Certain individuals (sometimes called fideists) have argued, for instance, that religious beliefs are not of a type properly subject to rational assessment and/or that assessing such beliefs demonstrates a lack of faith (Peterson et al. 2003, 45–48). But few philosophers currently hold this position. Most maintain that the exclusivist has at least the right to assess her beliefs in the face of religious diversity.
There continues, however, to be significant debate on whether an exclusivist is under an obligation to engage in such belief assessment. Some philosophers agree with Robert McKim that “disagreement about an issue or area of inquiry provides reason to think that each side has an obligation to examine beliefs about the issue” (McKim 2001, 140). The underlying assumption here is that when an individual's perspective on any issue, be it personal, social, economic, political, or religious, has important consequences for that person or others, then that individual is under an obligation to find the truth of the matter — to maximize truth. And an individual, in this case a religious exclusivist, can only attempt to maximize truth or avoid error in the face of diverse claims, it is argued, if she attempts to resolve the conflict.
The contention here, it must be emphasized, is not that such resolution is always possible or that an exclusivist must necessarily give up her belief if no resolution is forthcoming. Discussion concerning those issues is yet to come. The claim, rather, is only that the exclusivist is obligated at the very least to assess the evidence for and against the beliefs in question and to try to “get a sense of the appeal and of the concern of those who advocate them” (McKim 2001, 146).
Others philosophers disagree. For example, Alvin Plantinga acknowledges that if a proponent of a specific religious perspective has no reason to doubt that those with whom he disagrees really are on equal epistemic footing, then he is under a prima facie obligation to attempt to resolve the conflict. However, Plantinga denies that the Christian exclusivist need ever acknowledge that he is facing true epistemic parity — need ever admit that he actually is differing with true epistemic peers. Although the Christian exclusivist, we are told, may grant that those with whom he is in disagreement have not violated any epistemic duty and may know of no arguments that would convince those with whom he is in disagreement that they are wrong and he is right, the exclusivist is likely to believe that he “has been epistemically favored in some way.” He might believe, for instance, that he has been graced by “the Internal Witness of the Holy Spirit; or perhaps he thinks the Holy Spirit preserves the Christian church from serious error, at least with respect to the fundamentals of Christian belief; or perhaps he thinks that he has been converted by divine grace, so that he now sees what before was obscure to him — a blessing not so far bestowed upon the dissenters” (Plantinga 1997, 296).
Moreover, if any beliefs of this type are true, Plantinga contends, then the Christian exclusivist is quite probably “in a better position, epistemically speaking,” than those who reject the exclusivistic belief in question. Therefore, since it cannot be demonstrated that Christian belief of this sort is very likely false, the Christian remains justified in maintaining that the proponents of other religious perspectives are not actually on equal epistemic footing. And the same, Plantinga acknowledges, might well be true for exclusivists in other religious belief systems (Plantinga 1997, 296).
The strength of this line of reasoning depends in part on the debatable issue of who shoulders the burden of proof on the question of equal epistemic footing. Those siding with Plantinga argue in essence that unless an exclusivist must acknowledge on epistemic grounds that are (or should be) accepted by all rational people that those holding incompatible beliefs are actually on equal footing, the exclusivist can justifiably deny that this is so and thus need not engage in belief assessment. Those supporting obligatory belief assessment argue that it is the exclusivist who shoulders the burden of proof. Unless it can be demonstrated on epistemic grounds that are (or should be) accepted by all rational people that proponents of the competing perspectives are not actually on equal epistemic footing, the exclusivist must consider his challenger on equal epistemic footing and is thus obligated to engage in belief assessment (Basinger 2002, 26–27).
Another influential type of challenge to obligatory belief assessment in the face of religious diversity has been raised by Jerome Gellman. The focus of his challenge centers on what he identifies as rock bottom beliefs. Such beliefs, as Gellman defines them, are the epistemic givens in a religious belief system — the assumed, foundational truths upon which all else is built. Gellman grants that if a religious belief affirmed by an exclusivist is not rock bottom (is not a foundational assumption), then it may well be subject to obligatory belief assessment in the face of religious diversity. However, he argues, since belief assessment only makes sense when one isn't certain that the belief in question is true, and since rock bottom religious beliefs are among the foundational truths — the basic, assumed truths — in an exclusivist's epistemic system, no assessment is necessary. Rather, when an exclusivist encounters a challenge to such a belief — for example, a challenge to her rock bottom belief in God's ultimate control over all earthly affairs — she can, utilizing the G. E. Moore switch, justifiably maintain that because her rock bottom belief is true, the competing belief can be rejected (Gellman 1993, 345–364; Gellman 1998, 229–235).
Furthermore, Gellman has added more recently, even if we grant that rock bottom beliefs are at times open to belief assessment, the exclusivist need not engage in such assessment in the face of religious diversity unless she finds the awareness of such diversity causes her to lose significant confidence in her own perspective. In the absence of this type of internal conflict, she “may rationally invoke her unreflective religious belief to defeat opposing religious claims, without having to consider the question any further” (Gellman 2000, 403).
Some, though, remain uneasy with Gellman's contention that we need only assess those basic, rock bottom beliefs in which we have lost confidence. It is clearly the case that exclusivists do sometimes lose confidence in beliefs in which they once had a great deal of confidence, and that this was frequently due to the fact that these beliefs were rationally assessed. Consequently, if we assume, as it seems Gellman does, that one of our epistemic goals should be to maximize truth, then it doesn't appear, some maintain, that the fact that a challenged basic belief isn't at present “squeaking” is a sufficient reason for the religious exclusivist faced with diversity of opinion not to engage in belief assessment (Basinger 2002, 42–43).
What if we assume, as do most philosophers today, that belief assessment in the face of religious diversity will not normally resolve debate over conflicting religious perspectives in an objective manner? That is, what if we assume that while the consideration of criteria such as self-consistency and comprehensiveness can rule out certain options, there exists no set of criteria that will allow us to resolve most religious epistemic disputes (either between or within religious perspectives) in a neutral, nonquestion-begging fashion (Peterson et al. 2003, 40–53)? In what epistemic position does this then place the exclusivist? Or to use the phrasing preferred in the current “epistemology of disagreement” debates, to what extent, if any, is it reasonable for an exclusivist to retain her exclusivistic beliefs when it is acknowledged that epistemic peers disagree?
The answer, as some see it, is that the exclusivist can no longer justifiably maintain that her exclusivistic beliefs are true. J.C. Schellenberg, for example, argues that because no more than one among a set of incompatible truth claims can be true, a disputant in a debate over such claims is justified in continuing to maintain that her claim is true only if she possesses nonquestion-begging justification for believing the incompatible claim of any competitor to be false. However, since no disputant in religious conflicts possesses such justification, no disputant can be justified “in holding her own claim to be true.” Or, as Schellenberg states this conclusion in another context, we must conclude that in the absence of objective, nonquestion-begging justification, none of the disputants in religious conflicts “has justification for supposing the others' claims false” (Schellenberg 2000, 213). David Silver comes to a similar conclusion: “[Exclusivists] should provide independent evidence for the claim that they have a special source of religious knowledge … or they should relinquish their exclusivist religious beliefs” (Silver 2001, 11).
The proper response for the exclusivist, most in this camp argue, is to suspend judgment — is for the person who was an exclusivist to abandon her exclusivistic position and give equal weight to all the self-consistent, comprehensive perspectives in play (Christiansen, 2009; Feldman, 2007).
Others have not gone this far, arguing rather that while the exclusivist need not abandon religious belief in the face of unresolved conflict, she must or at least will hold her exclusive religious beliefs more tentatively (with less confidence). Philip Quinn argues, for instance, that acknowledged epistemic parity necessarily has a negative (epistemically humbling) impact on the level of justification for any religious belief system. Such parity does not necessarily minimize justification below a level sufficient for rational acceptability. But for those proponents of a religion who are “sufficiently aware of religious diversity, the justification that the [religion] receives from its sources is a good deal less than would be the case were there no such diversity” (Quinn, 2005a, 137). James Kraft agrees. When a person acknowledges that those with whom she disagrees are equivalently informed and capable and have made no obvious mistakes in reasoning, this person's confidence in her perspective, we are told, is rightly reduced (Kraft, 2007).
The tentativeness this reduction in confidence produces, McKim tell us, does not entail never-ending inquiry. What it means, rather, is that in the face of unresolved religious diversity, one should be open to the possibility “that one or more of the [alternatives] may be correct … that the position one had thought to be correct may be wrong [while] one of the other positions may be right” (McKim 2001, 154–55). Joseph Runzo and Gary Gutting agree. According to Runzo, “all faith commitments must be held with the humbling recognition that they can be misguided, for our knowledge is never sure” (Runzo 1993, 236). Gutting argues that only interim, not decisive assent is justified in the face of unresolved diversity and that “those who give merely interim assent must recognize the equal value, as an essential element in the continuing discussion, of beliefs contrary to theirs” (Gutting 1982, 108). Moreover, argues McKim, such tentativeness in the face of diversity has an important payoff. It can lead to deep tolerance: the allowance “that those with whom you disagree are people whom it is worthwhile to approach with rational arguments” (McKim 2001, 178) And personal tolerance of this sort, we are told, may well lead to a more tolerant and open society that will permit and even encourage a diversity of opinion on all issues, including opinions on religious matters.
William Alston represents an even more charitable response to exclusivism. His perspective is based on what he sees as a crucial distinction between two types of epistemic disputes: those in which “it is clear what would constitute non-circular grounds for supposing one of the contestants to be superior to the others” and those in which it is not. In the former case — in those cases in which there is a commonly accepted “procedure for settling disputes” — it isn't clear, he acknowledges, that it is rational for a person to continue to maintain that her position is superior (Alston 1988, 442–443).
However, as Alston sees it, there exists no such common ground for settling basic epitemic disputes over religious truth claims, and this, he contends, alters the situation drastically. It still remains true, he grants, that the reality of religious diversity diminishes justification. But the fact that “we are at a loss to specify [common ground]” means, he argues, that with respect to those religious perspectives that are self-consistent, it is not “irrational for one to remain an exclusivist” — not irrational for the proponent of any religious perspective to continue to hold that her perspective is true. That is, as Alston sees it, given the absence of common ground for resolving disputes, the proponent of any self-consistent religious perspective can justifiably continue to believe this perspective to be true “despite not being able to show that it is epistemically superior to the competition” (Alston 1988, 443–446).
In fact, at one point he goes even further. Because there exists at present no neutral ground for adjudicating religious epistemic conflicts, it is not only the case, Alston argues, that an exclusivist is justified (rational) in continuing to consider her own perspective superior. Since we do not even know in most cases what a non-circular reason for demonstrating superiority would look like, the “only rational course” for an exclusivist “is to sit tight” with the beliefs “which [have] served so well in guiding [her] activity in the world.” Or, to generalize this point, Alston speaks for those who maintain that, given the absence of common ground for adjudicating disputes concerning self-consistent religious perspectives, it is not rational for an exclusivist to stop maintaining that her system is superior (Alston 1988, 444).
Philip Quinn represents yet another, increasingly popular approach. While he agrees with Alston that in the face of diversity an exclusivist may well be justified in continuing to “sit tight” — in continuing to maintain that her religious perspective is true — he denies that this is the only rational course of action available (Quinn 2000, 235–246). The basis for this position is his distinction between a pre-Kantian and a Kantian understanding of religious belief. To have a pre-Kantian understanding of religious belief is to assume that we have (or at least can have) access to the truth as it really is. It is to believe, for instance, that we do (or at least can in principle) know what God is really like. To have a Kantian understanding of religious belief is to assume that although there is a literal noumenal reality, our understanding of this reality (and thus our truth claims about this reality) will of necessity be relative to the cultural/social/psychological grids through which our conceptualization of this noumenal reality is processed. It is to believe, for instance, that although there is a divine reality about which we can make truth claims, our understanding of (and thus our truth claims about) this divine reality will necessarily to some extent be conditioned by the ways in which our environment (our culture in the broadest sense) has shaped our categories of thought (Quinn 2000, 241–242).
Alston, Quinn contends, is essentially working off of a pre-Kantian model of religious belief when he encourages religious exclusivists to sit tight in the face of peer conflict since, in the absence of any objective basis for determining which perspective is right, the exclusivist has no sufficient reason not to do so. Quinn does not deny that this pre-Kantian approach is justifiable and thus does not deny that someone who follows Alston's advice to sit tight is rational in doing so. However, Quinn believes that “it should not be taken for granted that any of the [contending perspectives] in its present form is correct.” Hence, he believes it is equally justifiable for an exclusivist to adopt a Kantian approach to religious belief. Specifically, he believes it is equally justifiable for an exclusivist to assume that whatever any of us can know about the truth of the matter will never be a description of religious reality that is free of significant “cultural” conditioning. Accordingly, it is also rational, he maintains, for exclusivists encountering diverse truth claims to “seek a more inclusivist or pluralistic understanding of their own faith” by modifying their beliefs to bring them “into line with such an understanding” (Quinn 2000, 242).
In short, as Quinn sees it, those who hold a position such as Alston's have left us, at least implicitly, with a false dilemma: either we find common ground on which we can objectively determine which religious perspective is the truth or we sit tight with what we have. However, Quinn holds that, once we realize it is perfectly reasonable for a person to assume that the proponent of no religious perspective has (or even could have) an accurate understanding of divine reality as it really is, another rational alternative appears. We then see that it is also perfectly rational for a person to begin to revise her own phenomenological perspective on the truth in a way that will allow for greater overlap with the phenomenological perspectives of others.
The approach to conflicting religious perspectives Quinn outlines has in fact become increasingly popular in exclusivistic circles. Consider, for example, the ongoing debate among Christians over how God brought the rest of reality into existence. Some still claim the Bible clearly teaches that God created the “heavens and the earth” in six twenty-four hour periods about ten thousand years ago. Others still maintain that the fact that “a day is to the Lord as a thousand years” means that while God is directly responsible for what the Bible says was created each “day,” it is most reasonable to believe that the time frame for each instance of creative activity could well have been millions, or even billions, of years. And then there are those who still hold that God's direct creative activity consisted primarily of orchestrating the “Big Bang.” However, more recently, many Christians have taken a more Kantian approach. Based on their assumption that we may well not have access, even through Scripture, to exactly how God was involved in the creative process, they have modified what is to be considered essential to Christianity on this issue. Rather than affirming any of the specific explanations of how God created all else, they affirm a more general contention compatible with each of these specific explanations: that God is in some manner directly responsible for the existence of all else. They have, in Quinn's terms, thinned their core theologies in a way that reconciles the divergent perspectives.
Everyone realizes, though, that moving toward a thinner theology and thicker phenomenology can resolve the epistemic tension produced by religious diversity only to a certain extent. Even if we assume that it is perfectly reasonable, and possibly even preferable, for exclusivists to thin their theologies (and thus thicken their phenomenologies) in an attempt to minimize that core of truths that must be accepted to remain proponents of the specific theological perspectives in question, to be an exclusivist — even a strongly Kantian exclusivist — is still to believe that one's religious perspective is superior in the sense that it is in some important way closer to the truth than are the competing perspectives of others. Accordingly, while thinning her theology may be a rational choice that can minimize conflict, no one is arguing that it can be the sole response for an exclusivist. At some point, a person must either cease to be the exclusivist she was or choose one of the other options: acknowledge that the belief in question isn't true, hold it more tentatively, or sit tight with what she has.
Finally, we find at the far end of the spectrum those who deny that acknowledged peer conflict does in fact require the exclusivist to abandon her exclusivism or even reduce confidence in her exclusivistic perspectives. The key to this position is a distinction between personal (private) evidence and public evidence (evidence available to all persons involved in the dispute). It is granted that an individual will often find herself in epistemic disputes with persons who are epistemic peers in the sense that they are (1) equally intelligent, thoughtful, and free from obvious bias and (2) equally familiar with all the relevant public evidence. But the final judgments made by each participant in such disputes are not made solely on this public evidence, it is held. Such judgments are based also on personal beliefs to which only each participant has access. Jennifer Lackey notes, for instance, that each person in an epistemic dispute has greater access to the reliability of her own belief-forming faculties than do her epistemic competitors (Lackey, 2010). Ernest Sosa talks of “the gulf between the private and public domain” (Sosa 2008, Other Internet Resources). Peter van Inwagen speaks of “incommunicable insight that the others, for all their merits, lack” (van Inwagen, 1996). And the weight of this private evidence, it is argued, can make it reasonable for an individual to retain her beliefs (including exclusivistic religious beliefs) with the same level of confidence, even in the face of acknowledged peer disagreement in the public sense.
Some critics, of course, will maintain that this is primarily a verbal victory. The question, remember, is whether an exclusivist who acknowledges that epistemic peers hold incompatible perspectives can continue to justifiably maintain with full confidence that her perspective is superior. And it will seem to some that to claim that participants in epistemic disputes have access to relevant personal evidence not available to their epistemic competitors is in fact simply to acknowledge that the dispute is really not among true epistemic peers in the sense originally intended — that is, in the sense that all parties are assessing the same body of evidence.
Let us assume that an exclusivist is justified in retaining her exclusivistic belief in the face of religious diversity. Specifically, let us assume that the exclusivist can justifiably defend the epistemic right to retain her exclusivity in the face of such diversity. Ought she stop there or can she justifiably go further? Can she justifiably try to convince others that she is right — can she justifiably try to convert others to her perspective? And if so, is she in any sense obligated to do so?
Most who believe that such proselytization is not justified challenge the moral character of an exclusivist who attempts to convince those with whom she differs to accept her perspective as the sole truth. For instance, Wilfred Cantwell Smith argues that “except at the cost of insensitivity or delinquency, it is morally not possible actually to go out into the world and say to devout, intelligent fellow human beings [that] we believe that we know God and we are right; you believe that you know God, and you are totally wrong” (Smith 1976, 14). And when Runzo claims that exclusivism can be “highly presumptive” and “morally repugnant” (Runzo 1988, 348) or John Hick maintains that exclusivists often manifest a sort of arbitrariness or arrogance (Hick, 1989, 235), they too appear to be challenging the moral character of those who attempt to convert others to their perspective.
Not surprisingly, most exclusivists deny that it is insensitive or arrogant or presumptive for an exclusivist to attempt to convince others that her perspective is the correct one — to tell others that she is right and they are wrong. Since we are justified in believing our position to be superior to others — closer to the truth — it is difficult to see, exclusivists argue, how our attempts to convince others that they should agree can be considered arrogant or presumptive or insensitive, especially if we believe that it is important for the welfare of those we are attempting to convert that they do so. Moreover, exclusivists continue, while it is surely true that some conversion is attempted for what we would all agree are morally inappropriate reasons — for instance, for financial gain or to gain power over others — there is little empirical evidence that exclusivists in general have these motives. It is probably true, rather, that many, if not most, exclusivists who proselytize do so primarily because they believe they have what others need and are willing (sometimes at great personal cost) to share it with them.
Are, though, exclusivists required to proselytize? Many exclusivistic religious systems do require proselytization, and most philosophers who believe that exclusivists are justified in retaining their exclusivistic beliefs in the face of religious diversity believe also that these exclusivists can justifiably feel obligated to attempt to “convert” their epistemic competitors. With very few exceptions, though, philosophers deny that exclusivists are under any general obligation to proselytize, regardless of whether the exclusivistic system in question demands or encourages such proselytization.
Religious intolerance, defined as the practice of keeping others from acting in accordance with their religious beliefs, is not new. However, there is concern world-wide over the increasing amount, and increasingly violent nature, of such behavior. Accordingly, there is understandably a renewed interest in fostering religiously tolerant environments in which individuals with differing religious perspectives can practice their faiths unencumbered.
A number of philosophers have recently turned their attention to the relationship between religious diversity and religious tolerance, with the main focus on whether acknowledgement of, and subsequent reflection on, religious diversity might lead to greater religious tolerance. The main argument supporting the claim that acknowledged diversity can foster tolerance was proposed by the late Philip Quinn (Quinn, 2001, 57–80; 2002, 533–537; 2005a, 136–139). He maintained that (1) serious reflection on the undeniable reality of religious diversity will necessarily weaken an individual's justification for believing that her religious perspective is superior to the perspectives of others and that (2) this weakened justification can, and hopefully will for some, lead to greater religious tolerance — for example, will lead to a more accepting, less confrontational attitude toward others.
Both of Quinn's contentions have been challenged. The claim that reflection of the acknowledged reality of religious diversity reduces an individual's justified confidence in the superiority of her position has been subject to at least two types of criticism.
As noted earlier in our discussion of religious diversity and epistemic obligation (section 3), some philosophers agree with Alvin Plantinga that the proponent of a given religious perspective need not grant that his competitors are actually on equal epistemic footing and is thus justified in continuing to maintain that his perspective is superior without further reflection (Plantinga 1997, 296).
Other philosophers do not deny that proponents of differing religious perspectives are on equal epistemic footing or that reflection on these diversity perspectives might in some cases actually cause an individual to become less certain that her perspective is superior. But they deny that there is any necessary epistemic connection between acknowledged diversity and a weakening of justified personal commitment. That is, they argue that a proponent of a given religious perspective can acknowledge both that those holding perspectives differ from hers are epistemic peers and that she is not in a position to demonstrate objectively that her position is superior and yet justifiably continue to maintain that her perspective is in fact superior (Hasker, 2007; Basinger, 2007).
Quinn's second contention — that weakened justification in the superiority of one's perspective has the promising potential for fostering religious tolerance — has also been challenged. For instance, William Lane Craig, Robert McKim, and Keith Yandell have all argued recently that the weakening of a person's conviction that the specific teachings of her religion, including the relevant moral teachings that prohibit intolerance, are correct might in turn actually make it more likely that this person will engage in intolerant behavior as it may well deflate the very confidence in the relevant beliefs needed for inspiring tolerance (Craig, 2007; McKim 2007; Yandell, 2007).
Others, such as William Hasker, have questioned whether Quinn's challenge to those who hold firmly to the superiority of their religious perspectives — that the reality of religious diversity requires that they hold their perspectives less firmly — will have the effect Quinn intended. It was his hope that those challenged in this fashion would “soften” their exclusivistic convictions and thus be less likely to engage in intolerant behavior. But might not just the opposite occur? Might not those told that the reality of religious diversity reduces their justified confidence in their beliefs feel threatened and thus, in an attempt to “stand up for the truth,” become even more intolerant of those with other perspectives (Hasker, 2007)?
Those sympathetic to Quinn's position do not deny that some finding the justification for their religious beliefs challenged will respond defensively or that some coming to hold their religious beliefs less confidently might for that reason find themselves with a weaker basis for refraining from intolerant behavior. But those sympathetic to Quinn's “pathway from diversity to tolerance” maintain that acknowledged religious diversity can, and often does, foster in a person (1) a greater respect for her epistemic competitors and their positions and (2) a more flexible, inclusive understanding of her own position, and that those who respect their competitors and have a more inclusive understanding of their own perspectives are less likely to engage in inappropriate intolerant religious behavior (Basinger, 2007).
The discussion of religious diversity thus far has been framed in terms of truth claims (in terms of justified belief) because it is increasingly recognized by philosophers as the best way to access the most important questions that the reality of such diversity forces upon us. Historically, however, there has been one specific “diversity issue” with which philosophers have been most concerned: the question of the eternal destiny of humankind, that is, the question of who can spend eternity in God's presence — who can obtain salvation.
Those who are religious exclusivists on this question claim that those, and only those, who have met the criteria set forth by one religious perspective can spend eternity in God's presence. Adherents of other religious perspectives, it is acknowledged, can affirm truth related to some or many issues. But with respect to the question of salvation (one's eternal destiny), a person must be told about, acknowledge, and follow the unique way. Or, to be more specific, as salvific exclusivists see it, the criteria for salvation specified by the one correct religious perspective are both epistemologically necessary in the sense that those seeking salvation must be aware of these conditions for salvation and ontologically necessary in the sense that these conditions must really be met (Peterson et al. 2003, 270).
It is important to note, though, that not only Christians are salvific exclusivists. There are Muslims, for example, who hold that only those who commit themselves to Allah can spend eternity with the Divine. Also important to note is that differing, sometimes even conflicting, exclusivistic claims can exist within the same world religion. For instance, significant intra-Christian debate has centered historically on the eternal fate of young children who die. For some, the answer was (and still is) that all children who die are separated from God eternally. Others have believed that God “elects” some for heaven and allows the rest to spend eternity in hell, while still others have held that only the deceased children of believers are allowed to enter heaven or that salvation for children who die is tied to the sacrament of baptism. A more common belief today among Christians, though, is that all those who die in early childhood (or die having possessed only the mental capacities of young children) enter automatically into God's eternal presence (Basinger 1991, 4).
But what of those “adults” who die having never been aware of the salvific conditions of the one true religion? Is it not clearly unjust for exclusivists to claim that they cannot spend eternity with God because they have not met the criteria for salvation stipulated by this religion? For salvific inclusivists, the answer is yes. Like exclusivists, inclusivists believe that eternal existence in God's presence is only possible because of the salvific provisions noted in the one true religion. However, religious inclusivists allow that some adherents of other religions can be saved because of these provisions, even if the individuals in question haven't made the personal commitments normally stipulated as necessary to appropriate these salvific provisions. Put in philosophical language, as inclusivists see it, particular salvific events may be ontologically necessary for salvation in the sense that salvation cannot occur without them but not epistemically necessary in the sense that one need not know about them to be saved or liberated (Peterson et al. 2003, 280).
Probably the best known Christian proponent of this inclusivist perspective is Karl Rahner. Christianity, he argues, cannot recognize any other religion as providing the way to salvation. However, since God is love and desires everyone to be saved, God can apply the results of Jesus's atoning death and resurrection to everyone, even to those who have never heard of Jesus and his death or have never acknowledged his lordship. Just as adherents to pre-Christian Judaism were able, through the redemptive acts of Jesus of which they were not aware, to enter God's presence, so, too, is it possible for adherents of other religions to enter God's presence, even though they are not aware of the necessary redemptive acts of Jesus that makes this possible (Peterson et al. 2003, 280–281). Inclusivists, it should be noted, differ on the conditions such “anonymous Christians” must meet. Some stipulate, for instance, that those who have never heard “the gospel” still have both some innate knowledge of God and the freedom to establish a relationship with God and, therefore, that the eternal destiny of those in this category is dependent on the extent to which they commit as much as they knows of themselves to as much as they know of God through, or even apart from, a religion other than Christianity. Other inclusivists don't want to be as specific, maintaining only that, because God is just, there will surely be some adherents of other religions who will be in God's presence because they have met some set of divine conditions they have it within their power to meet (Paternoster 1967). But all agree these “anonymous Christians” are the recipients of supernatural grace.
Shahid Mutahhari is a respected proponent of Muslim inclusivism. Non-Muslims are at a disadvantage because it is the Islamic Divine Law that leads people to God. And those who fully understand this law (Islam) but choose not to accept the truth will be damned. However, in accordance with Islamic jurisprudence, God will be merciful to those who seek the truth but from whom, through no fault of their own, the reality of Islam remains hidden. Such people cannot be called unbelievers; they are rather “dispositional Muslims” since it is possible to possess the requisite spirit of submission without being Muslim in name. And these individuals will receive the divine grace necessary to achieve salvation from Hell (Mutahhari, 2006; Legenhausen, 1997).
Salvific pluralists, however, find such reasoning no more convincing than that offered by exclusivists. Inclusivists are right, pluralists grant, to say that individuals need not necessarily know of or fulfill certain requirements normally specificed in a given religion to attain salvation. But inclusivists, like exclusivists, are wrong to argue that this salvation is, itself, possible only because of certain conditions or events described in the one true religion. There is no one true religion and, therefore, no one, and only one, path to eternal existence with God.
Why, though, ought we consider this pluralistic salvific hypothesis more plausible than that offered by the exclusivist or inclusivist? According to Hick, the most influential proponent of pluralism, three factors make a pluralistic perspective the only plausible option. First, and foremost, he argues, is the reality of transformation parity. An efficacious salvific process is not just other-world centered — does not simply give individuals a “ticket” to eternal existence with God. It begins “the transformation from self-centeredness to Reality-centeredness” in this life (Hick 1984, 229). That is, an efficacious salvific process changes lives in the sense that it begins to turn people from thinking about, and acting only to enhance, their own personal well-being to viewing themselves as responsible participants in a much greater, more expansive reality. In short, an efficacious salvific process makes its participants better people. And all the evidence we have, Hick maintains, shows that many religions are equally transformational, given any general standard for positive transformation we might want to consider (Hick 1989, chapter 3).
There continues to be debate, however, over whether the same basic personal transformation actually does occur within various religions — over whether there is real transformational parity. Few claim that there is a strong experiential basis for denying such transformational parity or that it can be demonstrated on other objective, nonquestion-begging grounds that such parity does not exist. However, proponents of many basic theistic systems claim that while transformational parity may appear to be the case, this is actually not so — that is, claim that the transformation within their systems actually is qualitatively different than that produced by allegiance to other systems. It is sometimes argued, for instance, that the transformation within other systems will not last, or at least that this transformation, while possibly real and even lasting for a given individual, is not what it could have been for that individual within the one true theistic system. And some exclusivists have argued that unless it can be demonstrated in an objective, nonquestion-begging sense that they are not justified in affirming a religious perspective that makes such claims (which even Hick does not attempt to demonstrate), they are justified in denying that such parity actually exists (Clark 1997, 303–320).
Others have argued that focusing on transformational parity can also be used as an argument against salvific pluralism. The basis for this claim is the fact that people making a “secular” (non-religious) commitment to some goal, value, or metaphysical perspective — be it concern for the environment or world hunger or emotional health — often appear to have their lives transformed in ways quite similar to the ways in which the lives of religious believers are transformed. They, too, appear to have changed from self-centeredness to a focus on reality outside of self. If this is so, however, then might it not be that the religious transformational parity we observe is simply a sub-set of the general transformational parity we find among individuals who commit themselves to any perspective on life that centers reality outside of self, and thus that it is just as plausible to assume that all religious transformational parity is the result of some form of internal conceptual realignment than the result of some form of connection with an external divine reality? And if this is the case, it is argued, then transformational parity is at least weakened as support for any salvific perspective, whether pluralistic, inclusivistic, or exclusivistic (Basinger 2002, 64–69).
Seeming transformational parity is not, however, Hick's only reason for believing non-pluralistic salvific perspectives to be untenable. A credible perspective, he tells us, must account for the fact, “evident to ordinary people (even though not always taken into account by theologians) that in the great majority of cases — say 98 to 99 percent — the religion in which a person believes and to which he adheres depends upon where he was born” (Hick 1980, 44). And given this fact — given that “religious allegiance depends in the great majority of cases on the accident of birth” — it seems implausible to hold that “being born in our particular part of the world carries with it the privilege of knowing the full religious truth” (Hick 1997a, 287).
This contention, though, has also been challenged. No one denies that the admittedly high correlation between where and when a person is born and the religious perspective she affirms is relevant and might in fact negatively affect an exclusivist's confidence. But many exclusivists deny that a pluralistic explanation should be seen as the only plausible option. As they see it, exclusivists need not consider the high place-time/religious allegiance correlation in question in isolation from other relevant beliefs. For example, the Christian exclusivist need not consider this correlation in isolation from her basic belief that the Bible is an authoritative source of truth and that the Bible teaches that only the Christian perspective contains a totally accurate view of reality. And it is justifiable, some maintain, for exclusivists to consider the plausibility of such relevant background beliefs to outweigh the seeming counterevidence posed by the correlation in question (Plantinga 2000, 187; Plantinga 1997, 198).
Finally, Hick argues, a credible religious hypothesis must account for the fact, of which “we have become irreversibly aware in the present century, as the result of anthropological, sociological, and psychological studies and the work of philosophy of language,” that there is no one universal and invariable pattern for the interpretation of human experience, but rather a range of significantly different patterns or conceptual schemes “which have developed within the major cultural streams.” And when considered in this light, a “pluralistic theory becomes inevitable” (Hick 1984, 232).
While no one denies that culture shapes reality to some extent, it has again been argued that when comparing the plausibility of specific beliefs, we must consider not only these specific beliefs themselves but also the basic background beliefs in which they are embedded. Thus, even if we grant that a pluralistic response to the obvious shaping power of culture is preferable to any exclusivistic response when such shaping power is considered in isolation, it isn't clear to all exclusivists that Hick's hypothesis is so strong that it renders implausible the whole set of basic background beliefs out of which the exclusivist's response to the profound shaping influence of culture on religious belief arises. Hence, it isn't clear to all exclusivists that they can't justifiably reject Hick's contention that a pluralisitic cultural/religious interpretation of reality must inevitably be considered superior (Basinger 2002, 74).
Hick argues for salvific pluralism on what might best be called metaphysical or epistemological grounds. Other philosophers, however, have attempted to make a moral case for salvific pluralism (or at least against salvific exclusivism.) For instance, Kenneth Himma has argued recently that moral considerations require Christian salvific exclusivism to be rejected (Himma 2002, 1–33). It follows both from God's perfection and conceptual truths about punishment, Himma maintains, that God would not punish individuals who are not morally culpable for their behavior. But those with non-Christian beliefs are generally not morally culpable for the fact that they hold these beliefs. Not only is it not the case that any objective line of reasoning demonstrates the Christian (or any other religious) path to salvation to be the correct one, religious traditions are, themselves, extremely elastic. That is, because of the shaping, foundational nature of basic religious belief, devout proponents of any given religion are capable of (in fact, usually simply find themselves) offering self-consistent responses to almost any challenge to their salvific perspective, no matter how strong or damaging this challenge might seem on the surface. Furthermore, recent sociological, psychological, and anthropological studies have confirmed that while one's basic religious beliefs are not inevitable, they are quite often to a significant extent “beyond the direct volitional control of the believer” (Himma 2002, 18). So we must conclude, argues Himma, that it would not be morally just for the Christian God to deny salvation to devout people of other faiths.
Not surprisingly, many nonexclusivists and pluralists will find this basic line of reasoning persuasive. However, some (although not all) exclusivists reject the basic moral assumption on which Himma's argument is based: that we are in a position to correctly identify some of the basic moral principles that guide God's interaction with us as humans. Specifically, while many Christian exclusivists do believe that God's behavior is guided by the same basic principles of justice and fairness that are so fundamental to our human moral thinking, this is not true for all. There is a strong Christian tradition that holds that God is under no obligation to treat any individual in what we would consider a just, fair fashion. God can do what God wants (including how God responds to those who haven't affirmed Christian beliefs) for whatever purposes God has, and it is right simply because God has done it. And even among those Christian exclusivists who come to acknowledge Himma's basic point — that a just God cannot condemn those who aren't culpable for their non-Christian beliefs — the response has normally not been to reject their overall exclusivistic perspective. It is often simply assumed, rather, that “God's ways are above our ways” in some manner unfathomable to the human mind.
However, even if we were to agree with pluralists that both exclusivists and inclusivists are wrong to claim that the basis for true salvation can be found in only one religion, the question of what type of pluralistic hypothesis we ought to affirm remains. Hick, himself, favors what might be called a selective pluralism that centers on the world's great religions. Hick has never denied that the major world religions — Christianity, Hinduism, Buddhism, Islam — make conflicting truth claims. In fact, he believes that “the differences of belief between (and within) the traditions are legion” and has often discussed these conflicts in great detail (Hick 1983, 487). His basic pluralistic claim, rather, is that such differences are best seen as differing ways in which differing cultures have conceived of and experienced the one ultimate divine Reality. Each major religious perspective “constitutes a valid context of salvation/liberation; but none constitutes the one and only such context” (Hick 1984, 229, 231).
Why, however, select only the paths offered by the world's great religions as ways to salvation? For Hick the answer lies in the fact that, unlike “Satanism, Nazism, the Order of the Solar Temple, etc.,” the world's great religions offer paths that lead us away from “hatred, misery, aggression, unkindness, impatience, violence, and lack of self-control” to love, joy, peace, patience, kindness, goodness, faithfulness, gentleness, and self-control (Hick 1997b, 164). Some, though, see this sort of ethical standard for acceptable salvific perspectives to be as arbitrary as the standard for acceptable paths to salvation set forth by exclusivists or inclusivists (Meeker 2003, 5). In fact, some have questioned whether, given this rather specific ethical criterion for assessing the salvific adequacy of religions, Hick's perspective should actually be considered pluralistic at all.
S. Mark Heim, for instance, argues that pluralists such as Hick are really inclusivists in disguise in that they advocate only one path to salvation — the transformation from self-centeredness to Reality-centeredness — and thus in essence deny that diverse religions have real, fundamental salvific differences. A better, more honest salvific pluralism, we are told, is to acknowledge that each religion has its own path to salvation that may be either similar to or different from that of other religions. That is, a more honest pluralistic perspective is to deny that the seemingly different salvific paths offered by various religious traditions are all just culturally distinct manifestations of the same fundamental path and maintain instead that salvific paths of various religions remain incompatible, but equally valid ways to achieve salvation. This is not to say, of course, it is acknowledged, that all the details of all the salvific paths are actually true since some of the relevant claims are inconsistent. But the appropriate response to this is not to claim there is one true path to salvation. It is rather to claim that many distinct paths, while remaining distinct, can lead to salvation (Heim 1995).
Critics, however, wonder whether part of this seeming disagreement is verbal in nature. Heim can appear to be bypassing the question of whether there is some sort of final, ultimate eschatological salvific state that the proponents of various religious perspectives will all experience, emphasizing rather that many distinct religious paths can liberate people (produce salvation) here and now (Peterson et al. 2003, 280). Hick, on the other hand, seems most concerned with the nature salvific reality — with what it means to experience salvation — while not denying that there exist in this world distinct ways that remain distinct to access this ultimate reality.
Public education in Western culture has always been to some extent a “melting pot.” But the increasing number of students with non-Western cultural values and religious traditions is causing public school educators to grapple in new and sometimes uncomfortable ways with the challenges such diversity poses. Some of these challenges are practical — e.g., should Muslim girls be allowed to wear burkas, should schools designate only Christian religious holy days as school holidays? The focus of this section, however, will be a pedagogical question of increasing interest in the philosophy of education: How ought the increasing religious diversity to which students are exposed affect public school curricula? (Basinger, 2010).
Most public school educators agree that increasing student understanding of diverse religious perspectives is important as this will have positive social outcomes. It is often argued, for instance, that helping students better understand the increasing diversity, including religious diversity, they face will better prepare them to live in a peaceful, productive manner with those with differing cultural and/or religious values (Kunzman, 2006).
Many educators, however, want to go further. It is also important, they maintain, for students to clarify their feelings about other religions and their followers. Specifically, they want to foster a more empathetic understanding of other religious perspectives, an understanding that encourages students to appreciate the other religions from the perspective of an adherent of that religion (Kunzman, 2006). While few challenge this as a valid goal, there is, though, continuing controversy over one common method by which educators attempt to engender this type of empathy in students. As some see it, while having students think about diverse religions is an important step past the mere dissemination of factual information toward empathetic understanding, having students directly experience these religions in some way — for instance, having students visit a local mosque or having a representative from a Buddhist Center share with students in a class — is also necessary (or at least very desirable). However, while no one denies that these forms of direct experience might broaden a student's empathetic understanding of a religion, concerns have been raised.
First, some believe that having students experience a religion, even as “observers,” can test the limits of the separation of church and state. While the intent of having students attend a mosque or having a Buddhist talk with students is seldom to “promote” a religion, the line between “exposure” and intended or unintended promotion (and even proselytization), they maintain, is a fine one, especially given the widely varying communication skills and deeply embedded values and preconceptions of the teacher and/or the representatives of a given religion to whom students might be exposed. Second, there is growing ethical concern that to experience a religion as an observer might in some cases trivialize or demean the religion in question. Some Native Americans, for instance, are becoming increasingly concerned with the growing desire of “outsiders” to seek understanding of their religion(s) by watching or experiencing sacred ceremonies since such observation, they believe, can trivialize these ceremonies (Kasprisin, 2003: 422).
Is it justifiable for the public school educator to go even further than the dissemination of accurate information and the attempted engendering of empathetic understanding? Specifically, ought an educator attempt to bring it about that all students affirm a core set of “appropriate” beliefs about other religions and their adherents?
It is clearly the case that almost all public school educators currently do attempt to bring it about that students hold certain beliefs related to pervasive human characteristics, such as race, gender, and disabling conditions. Students are encouraged, for instance, to continue to believe, or come to believe, that engaging in intolerant or discriminatory behavior is wrong and that they should affirm, or come to affirm, the inherent worth and rights of the disabled, those of other racial/ethnic backgrounds, etc. So if the desire is simply to also encourage students to believe it wrong to treat those of other religions in intolerant or discriminatory ways and to believe it right to accept those of other religions as persons with equal inherent value, few will object.
But need teachers stop there? Might there not be other beliefs about religions and their adherents that public school educators can justifiably attempt to bring it about that all students accept? We can extrapolate from some recent work on religious diversity by Robert Wuthnow to introduce two beliefs that some might propose fit into this category. As Wuthnow sees it, the most appropriate response to the increasing religious diversity we face in this country is what he labels “reflective pluralism” (Wuthnow, 2005: 286–307). To engage is this sort of reflection, he tells us, is not simply to become better informed, or to strive to “live peacefully with those with whom one disagrees” (be tolerant), or even to attempt to develop an empathetic understanding of diverse religions. It is to engage intentionally and purposefully with “people and groups whose religious practices are fundamentally different from one's own” (Wuthnow, 2005: 289). And such engagement, as he understands it, includes both (1) the recognition that since all of our beliefs, including our religious beliefs, depend on a point of view “shaped by the culture in which we live,” we should not regard our “own position[s] as inherently superior” and (2) “a principled willingness to compromise” in the sense that we must be willing to move out of our social and emotional comfort levels “in order to arrive at a workable relationship with another person” (Wuthnow, 2005: 292).
The benefit of this form of engagement, we are told, is not only that it can minimize the likelihood of the sorts of “religious tensions, conflicts, and violence [that] have been so much a part of human history” (Wuthnow, 2005: 293). Such reflective engagement also allows us to focus on “the shared concerns for basic human dignity” found in the teachings of many of the world's religions, which can furnish a basis for inter-religious cooperation to combat social ills and meet basic social needs (Wuthnow, 2005: 294).
It is important to note that Wuthnow does not explicitly claim or deny that encouraging students in a public school setting to become reflective pluralists would be appropriate. But not only does he highlight two increasingly popular pluralistic claims about religions — (1) that the beliefs of many religions are equally valid expressions of faith, expressions that adherents of these religions should be allowed or even encouraged to maintain and (2) that religious believers of all faiths should identify and focus on what these religions have in common — he highlights what such pluralists often note as the main benefits of widespread affirmation of these beliefs: a reduction in violent religious conflicts and an increase in socially beneficial inter-religious cooperation. And these outcomes are clearly quite compatible with what we have seen to be a key reason why public school educators want to increase student understanding of other religions — namely, their desire to better prepare students to live in a peaceful, productive manner in social contexts that will increasingly be characterized by religious diversity. Accordingly, since it seems reasonable to believe that widespread acceptance of the validity of diverse religious perspectives and increased focus on the commonalities in diverse religions might well result in more peaceful, mutually beneficial interaction among followers of diverse religions, the question of whether public school teachers can justifiably attempt to bring it about that students affirm the beliefs in question appears worthy of exploration.
Let's first consider the contention that many religions contain equally valid expressions of faith. Even if we make the debatable assumption that this is true, it won’t be clear to many that a public school teacher could justifiably attempt to bring it about that her or his students believed this to be so. The problem is that various religions affirm conflicting doctrinal beliefs on significant issues. For example, while conservative Christians maintain that one must affirm certain beliefs about the saving power of Christ to spend eternity in God's presence, conservative Muslims strongly deny this. Orthodox Christians and Muslims are taught not only that the sacred scriptures of other religions contain false beliefs; they are often encouraged to try to convert those of other religions to their religious perspective. And while many Muslims and Christians believe in a personal supernatural creator and personally immortality, some Buddhists deny both. This, however, means that an educator can justifiably attempt to convince students that all religions are equally valid expressions of faith only if she or he can justifiably attempt to convince conservative proponents of some of these religions that some of their core doctrinal beliefs need to be modified or rejected. And to attempt to do this in a public school setting will be seen by many as violating the prohibition against both restricting the free exercise of religion and promoting a given religion (Basinger, 2010).
Might it not, though, at least be justifiable for a public school educator to encourage students to respect the right of adherents to other religions to retain their current religious beliefs? If we interpret this as asking whether an educator can justifiably encourage students not to attempt to prohibit adherents to other religions from expressing and acting in accordance with their beliefs, a positive response is noncontroversial since this is only to say once again that educators should encourage students to be tolerant. However, to encourage respect for the religious beliefs of others often carries with it the explicit or implicit assumption that it is inappropriate, if not unethical, to attempt to convince adherents of one religion to convert to another. And for a public school educator to attempt to convince all students that it is wrong to proselytize will again be seen by some as placing this educator in the legally and morally questionable position of attempting to convince some students to reject or modify what for them is a very fundamental, core religious belief.
Perhaps, however, there is a different, less controversial option for those educators who want to do more than simply encourage tolerance of expression and empathetic understanding. Is it not at least justifiable for the public school teacher to attempt to point out the important common values affirmed by most of the world's major religions, values that we can all accept and should all desire to see lived out? Is it not justifiable for an educator to point out, for instance, that most of the world's major religions prohibit such things as killing, lying, stealing, and sexual exploitation, and that these same religions encourage such things as helping those in need and treating adherents of other religions with respect. To do so, it has been argued, would not simply be of value within the classroom or community. Since religious convictions clearly influence social, political and economic activity on a global scale, emphasizing the shared common values of religions has the potential to facilitate better global relationships. And to encourage such relationships is surely an appropriate goal of public education (Shingleton, 2008).
Some, of course, will see any focus on “positive commonalities” as yet another thinly veiled attempt to encourage students to modify their current religious beliefs in ways that make such beliefs more accommodating of other religious perspectives. However, most see no legal or ethical reason why a teacher should not expose students to the “positive commonalities” in diverse religious perspectives, and many see this as a helpful step.
As we have seen, discussions of religious diversity lend themselves to no easy answers. The issues are many, the arguments complex, and the responses varied. It would be hard, though, to overstate the practical significance of this topic. While some (many) issues that philosophers discuss have practical implications for how we view ourselves and treat others, none is more relevant today than the question of religious diversity. Exclusivistic religious convictions have not only motivated impassioned behavior in the past — behavior that has affected significantly the lives of many — such convictions clearly continue to do so today. So to the extent that such exclusivistic behavior is based on inadequate conceptual tools and/or fallacious reasoning, the continuing philosophical discussions of religious diversity that clarify issues and assess arguments may well be of great practical value.
- Alston, W., 1988, “Religious Diversity and the Perceptual Knowledge of God,” Faith and Philosophy, 5: 433–448.
- Arthur, C., 2000, Religious Pluralism: A Metaphorical Approach, The Davies Group Publishers.
- Basinger, D., 1991, “Divine Omniscience and the Soteriological Problem of Evil: Is the Type of Knowledge God Possesses Relevant?” Religious Studies, 28: 1–18.
- –––, 2002, Religious Diversity: A Philosophical Assessment, Burlington, VT: Ashgate Publishing Company.
- –––, 2008, “How Religious Diversity Can and Does Foster Religious Tolerance,” in Religious Tolerance Through Epistemic Humility: Thinking With Philip Quinn,, J. Kraft and D. Basinger, (eds.), Burlington, VT: Ashgate Publishing Company.
- –––, 2010, “Religious Diversity in Public Education,” in the Oxford Handbook of Religious Diversity, C. Meister (ed.), Oxford: Oxford University Press, forthcoming.
- Christensen, D., 2007 “Epistemology of Disagreement: The Good News,” The Philosophical Review, 116: 187–217.
- –––, 2009, “Disagreement as Evidence: The Epistemology of Controversy,” Philosophy Compass, 5: 756 –756.
- Clark, K., 1997 “Perils of Pluralism,” Faith and Philosophy, 14: 303–320.
- Craig, W., 2008, “Is Uncertainty a Sound Foundation for Religious Tolerance?” in Religious Tolerance Through Epistemic Humility: Thinking With Philip Quinn, J. Kraft and D. Basinger, (eds.), Burlington, VT: Ashgate Publishing Company.
- D'Costa G.,1986, Theology and Religious Pluralism: The Challenge of Other Religions, London: Blackwell Publishers.
- –––, 1990, Christian Uniqueness Reconsidered: the Myth of a Pluralistic Theology of Religions, Maryknoll, NY: Orbis Books.
- Dupuis, J., 1999, Toward a Christian Theology of Religious Pluralism, Maryknoll, NY: Orbis Books.
- Feldman R., 2006, “Epistemological Puzzles About Disagreement,” in Epistemology Futures, Hetherington, R., (ed.), Oxford Press, USA.
- Gellman, J., 1993, “Religious Diversity and the Epistemic Justification of Religious Belief,” Faith and Philosophy, 10: 345–64.
- –––, 1998, “Epistemic Peer Conflict and Religious Belief: A Reply to Basinger,” Faith and Philosophy, 15: 229–235.
- –––, 2000, “In Defense of Contented Religious Exclusivism,” Religious Studies, 36: 401–417.
- Griffiths, P., 1988, “An Apology for Apologetics,” Faith and Philosophy, 5: 399–420.
- –––, 1991, An Apology for Apologetics: A Study in the Logic of Inter-religious Dialogue, Maryknoll, NY: Orbis Books.
- –––, 2002, Problems of Religious Diversity, London: Blackwell.
- Gutting, G., 1982, Religious Belief and Religious Skepticism, Notre Dame: University of Notre Dame Press.
- Hasker, W., 2008, “‘Thinner Theologies’, Religious Diversity, and Religious Tolerance,” in Religious Tolerance Through Epistemic Humility: Thinking With Philip Quinn, J. Kraft and D. Basinger, (eds.), Burlington, VT: Ashgate Publishing Company.
- Heim, M., 1995, Salvation: Truth and Difference in Religion, Maryknoll, NY: Orbis Books.
- Hick, J., 1980, God Has Many Names, London: Macmillan Press, Ltd.
- –––, 1983, “On Conflicting Religious Truth-Claims,” Religious Studies, 19: 485-491.
- –––, 1984, “The Philosophy of World Religions,” Scottish Journal of Theology, 37: 229–236.
- –––, 1985, Problems of Religious Pluralism, New York: St. Martin's Press.
- –––, 1989, An Interpretation of Religion: Human Responses to the Transcendent, New Haven: Yale University Press.
- –––, 1997a, “The Epistemological Challenge of Religious Pluralism,” Faith and Philosophy, 14: 277–286.
- –––, 1997b, “The Possibility of Religious Pluralism: A Reply to Gavin D'Costa,” Religious Studies, 33: 161–166.
- Hillman, E., 1989, Many Paths: A Catholic Approach to Religious Pluralism, Maryknoll, NY: Orbis Books.
- Himma, K., 2002, “Finding a High Road: The Moral Case for Salvific Pluralism,” International Journal for Philosophy of Religion, 52: 1–33.
- Kasprisin, L., 2003, “Religious Diversity, Education, and the Concept of Separation: Some Further Questions,” in Philosophy of Education, K. Alston, (ed.), Urbana, IL: Philosophy of Education Society/University of Illinois Urbana-Champaign: 420–422.
- Kaufman, G., 1996, God-Mystery-Diversity: Christian Theology in a Pluralistic World, Minneapolis, MN: Fortress Press.
- Kelly T., 2005, “The Epistemic Significance of Disagreement,” in Oxford Studies in Epistemology, T. Szabo (ed.), Oxford: Clarendon Press, 167–195.
- Kraft, J., 2006, “Philip Quinn's Contribution to the Epistemic Challenge of Religious Diversity,” Religious Studies, 42: 453–465.
- –––, 2007, “Religious Disagreement, Externalism, and the Epistemology of Disagreement: Listening to Our Grandmothers,” Religious Studies, 43: 417–432.
- –––, 2011, The Epistemology of Religious Disagreement: A Better Understanding, chapter 4 (forthcoming from Palgrave/Macmillan).
- Knitter, P., 1985, No Other Name? A Critical Survey of Christian Attitudes towards the World Religions, Maryknoll, NY: Orbis Books.
- Kunzman, R., 2006, “Imaginative Engagement with Religious Diversity in the Public School Classrooms,” Religious Education, 101(4): 516–531.
- Lackey, J., 2010, “A Justificationist View of Disagreement's Epistemic Significance,” in Disagreement, Feldman, R. and Warfield, T., (eds.), Oxford: Oxford University Press.
- Lamptey, J., 2010, “Embracing Relationality and Theological Tensions: Muslim Theology, Religious Diversity, and Fate,” presented at the International Symposium on Islam, Salvation, and the Fate of Others (University of Illinois, April 15–17, 2010) and forthcoming in a published collection of symposium presentations.
- Legenhausen, M., 1997, “Islam and Religious Pluralism,” Al-Tawhid, 14 (3), available online.
- –––, 2005, “A Muslim's Non-Reductive Religious Pluralism,” in Islam and Global Dialogue: Religious Pluralism and the Pursuit of Peace, Boase, R., (ed.), Surrey: Ashgate.
- –––, 2009, “On the Plurality of Religious Pluralisms,” International Journal of Hekmat, 1 (Autumn): 6–42, available online.
- Mutahhari, S., 2006, Islam and Religious Pluralism, Stanmore: The World Federation of KSIMC.
- Meeker, K., 2003, “Exclusivism, Pluralism, and Anarchy,” in God Matters: Readings in the Philosophy of Religion, R. Martin and C. Bernard, (eds.), New York: Longman, 524–534.
- McKim, R., 2001, Religious Ambiguity and Religious Diversity, Oxford: Oxford Press.
- –––, 2008, “A Path to (and beyond) Tolerance,” in Religious Tolerance Through Epistemic Humility: Thinking With Philip Quinn, J. Kraft and D. Basinger, (eds.), Burlington, VT: Ashgate Publishing Company.
- Netland, H., 1991, Dissonant Voices: Religious Pluralism and the Question of Truth, Grand Rapids: Eerdmans.
- Pals, D., 1996, Seven Theories of Religion, New York: Oxford University Press.
- Paternoster, M., 1967, Thou Art There Also: God, Death, and Hell, London: SPCK.
- Peterson, M., Hasker, W., Reichenbach, B., and Basinger, D., 2009, Reason and Religious Belief: An Introduction to the Philosophy of Religion (4th edition), New York: Oxford University Press.
- Plantinga, A., 1997, “Ad Hick,” Faith and Philosophy, 14: 295–298.
- –––, 2000, “Pluralism: A Defense of Religious Exclusivism,” in The Philosophical Challenge of Religious Diversity, K. Meeker and P.Quinn (eds.), New York: Oxford University Press, 172–192.
- Quinn, P., 2000, “Toward Thinner Theologies: Hick and Alston on Religious Diversity,” in The Philosophical Challenge of Religious Diversity, K. Meeker and P.Quinn, (eds.), New York: Oxford University Press, 226–243.
- –––, 2001, “Religious Diversity and Religious Toleration,” International Journal for the Philosophy of Religion, 50: 57–80;
- –––, 2002, “Epistemology in Philosophy of Religion,” in The Oxford Handbook on Epistemology, P. Moser (ed.), Oxford: Oxford University Press, 533–37.
- –––, 2005a, “On Religious Diversity and Tolerance,” Daedalus, Winter: 136–139.
- –––, 2005b, “Religious Diversity: Familiar Problems, Novel Opportunities,” in The Oxford Handbook of Philosophy of Religion, W. Wainwright, (ed.), Oxford: Oxford University Press, 392–417.
- Runzo, J., 1988, “God, Commitment, and Other Faiths: Pluralism vs. Relativism,” Faith and Philosophy, 5: 343–364.
- –––, 1993, World Views and Perceiving God, New York: St. Martin's Press.
- Schellenberg, J., 2000, “Religious Experience and Religious Diversity: A Reply to Alston,” in The Philosophical Challenge of Religious Diversity, K. Meeker and P.Quinn, (eds.), New York: Oxford University Press, 208–217.
- Senor, T. (ed.), 1995, The Rationality of Belief and the Plurality of Faith. Ithaca: Cornell University Press.
- Shingleton, B., 2008, “In Search of Common Ground: The Role of a Global Ethic in Inter-Religious Dialogue,” Carnegie Ethics Online, available online.
- Silver, D., 2001, “Religious Experience and the Facts of Pluralism,” International Journal for the Philosophy of Religion, 49: 1–17.
- Smith, W., 1976, Religious Diversity, New York: Harper and Row.
- Suchocki, M., 2003, Divinity and Diversity, Nashville, Abingdon Press.
- Tracy, D., 1995, Blessed Rage of Order: The New Pluralism in Theology, Chicago: University of Chicago Press.
- van Inwagen, P., 1996, “It is Wrong, Everywhere, Always, and for Anyone, to Believe Anything Upon Insufficient Evidence,” in Faith, Freedom, and Rationality: Philosophy of Religion Today,, Jordan J. and Howard-Snyder, H., (eds.), Lanham: Rowman and Littlefield Publishers.
- Ward, K., 1994, Religion and Revelation: A Theology of Revelation in the World's Religions, Oxford: Clarendon Press.
- Willard, J., 2001, “Alston's Epistemology of Religious Belief and the Problem of Religious Diversity,” Religious Studies, 37: 59–74.
- Wuthnow, R., 2005, America and the Challenge of Religious Diversity, Princeton: Princeton University Press.
- Yandell, K., 2008, “Religious Pluralism and Epistemic Humility,” in Religious Tolerance Through Epistemic Humility: Thinking With Philip Quinn, J. Kraft and D. Basinger, (eds.), Burlington, VT: Ashgate Publishing Company.
How to cite this entry. Preview the PDF version of this entry at the Friends of the SEP Society. Look up this entry topic at the Indiana Philosophy Ontology Project (InPhO). Enhanced bibliography for this entry at PhilPapers, with links to its database.
- Sosa, E., 2008, “The Epistemology of Disagreement,” (Brown University), manuscript.
- The Pluralism Project, Harvard University.
- New Age Islam: Mapping an Agenda for the Twenty-first Century.