# Alternative Axiomatic Set Theories

*First published Tue May 30, 2006; substantive revision Tue Apr 3, 2012*

By “alternative set theories” we mean systems of set theory differing
significantly from the dominant *ZF* (Zermelo-Frankel set
theory) and its close relatives (though we will review these systems in
the article). Among the systems we will review are typed theories of
sets, Zermelo set theory and its variations, New Foundations and
related systems, positive set theories, and constructive set theories.
An interest in the range of alternative set theories does not
presuppose an interest in replacing the dominant set theory with one of
the alternatives; acquainting ourselves with foundations of mathematics
formulated in terms of an alternative system can be instructive as
showing us what any set theory (including the usual one) is supposed to
do for us. The study of alternative set theories can dispel a facile
identification of “set theory” with “Zermelo-Fraenkel set theory”;
they are not the same thing.

- 1. Why set theory?
- 2. Naive set theory
- 3. Typed theories
- 4. Zermelo set theory and its refinements
- 5. Theories with classes
- 6. New Foundations and related systems
- 7. Positive set theories
- 8. Logically motivated variations
- 9. Small set theories
- 10. Double extension set theory: a curiosity.
- 11. Conclusion
- Bibliography
- Academic Tools
- Other Internet Resources
- Related Entries

## 1. Why set theory?

Why do we do set theory in the first place? The most immediately familiar objects of mathematics which might seem to be sets are geometric figures: but the view that these are best understood as sets of points is a modern view. Classical Greeks, while certainly aware of the formal possibility of viewing geometric figures as sets of points, rejected this view because of their insistence on rejecting the actual infinite. Even an early modern thinker like Spinoza could comment that it is obvious that a line is not a collection of points (whereas for us it may hard to see what else it could be) (Ethics, I.15, scholium IV, 96).

Cantor's set theory (which we will not address directly here as it was not formalized) arose out of an analysis of complicated subcollections of the real line defined using tools of what we would now call topology (Cantor 1872). A better advertisement for the usefulness of set theory for foundations of mathematics (or at least one easier to understand for the layman) is Dedekind's definition of real numbers using “cuts” in the rational numbers (Dedekind 1872) and the definition of the natural numbers as sets due to Frege and Russell (Frege 1884).

Most of us agree on what the theories of natural
numbers, real numbers, and Euclidean space ought to look like (though
constructivist mathematicians will have differences with classical
mathematics even here). There was at least initially less agreement as
to what a theory of sets ought to look like (or even whether there
ought to be a theory of sets). The confidence of at least some
mathematicians in their understanding of this subject (or in its
coherence as a subject at all) was shaken by the discovery of
paradoxes in “naive” set theory around the beginning of the 20th
century. A number of alternative approaches were considered then and
later, but a single theory, the Zermelo-Frankel theory with the Axiom
of Choice (*ZFC*) dominates the field in practice. One of the
strengths of the Zermelo-Frankel set theory is that it comes with an
image of what the world of set theory is (just as most of us have a
common notion of what the natural numbers, the real numbers, and
Euclidean space are like): this image is what is called the
“cumulative hierarchy” of sets.

### 1.1 The Dedekind construction of the reals

In the 19th century, analysis (the theory of the real numbers) needed to be put on a firm logical footing. Dedekind's definition of the reals (Dedekind 1872) was a tool for this purpose.

Suppose that the rational numbers are understood (this is of course a major assumption, but certainly the rationals are more easily understood than the reals).

Dedekind proposed that the real numbers could be uniquely correlated
with *cuts* in the rationals, where a cut was determined by a
pair of sets (*L*, *R*) with the following properties:
*L* and *R* are sets of rationals. *L* and
*R* are both nonempty and every element of *L* is less
than every element of *R* (so the two sets are
disjoint). *L* has no greatest element. The union of *L*
and *R* contains all rationals.

If we understand the theory of the reals prior to the cuts, we can say
that each cut is of the form *L* = (−∞,
*r*) ∩ **Q**, *R* =
[*r*, ∞) ∩ **Q**, where
**Q** is the set of all rationals and *r* is a
unique real number uniquely determining and uniquely determined by the
cut. It is obvious that each real number *r* uniquely
determines a cut in this way (but we need to show that there are no
other cuts). Given an arbitrary cut (*L*, *R*), we
propose that *r* will be the least upper bound of
*L*. The Least Upper Bound Axiom of the usual theory of the
reals tells us that *L* has a least upper bound (*L* is
nonempty and any element of *R* (which is also nonempty) is an
upper bound of *L*, so *L* has a least upper
bound). Because *L* has no greatest element, its least upper
bound *r* cannot belong to *L*. Any rational number less
than *r* is easily shown to belong to *L* and any
rational number greater than or equal to *r* is easily shown to
belong to *R*, so we see that the cut we chose arbitrarily (and
so any cut) is of the form *L* = (−∞, *r*) ∩
**Q**, *R* = [*r*, ∞) ∩
**Q**.

A bolder move (given a theory of the rationals but no prior theory of
the reals) is to *define* the real numbers as cuts. Notice that
this requires us to have not only a theory of the rational numbers
(not difficult to develop) but also a theory of sets of rational
numbers: if we are to understand a real number to be identified with a
cut in the rational numbers, where a cut is a pair of sets of rational
numbers, we do need to understand what a set of rational numbers
is. If we are to demonstrate the existence of particular real numbers,
we need to have some idea what sets of rational numbers there are.

An example: when we have defined the rationals, and then defined the
reals as the collection of Dedekind cuts, how do we define the square
root of 2? It is reasonably straightforward to show that ({*x*
∈ **Q** | *x* < 0
∨
*x*^{2} < 2}, {*x* ∈ **Q**
| *x* > 0 & *x*^{2} ≥ 2}) is a cut and
(once we define arithmetic operations) that it is the positive square
root of two. When we formulate this definition, we appear to
presuppose that any property of rational numbers determines a set
containing just those rational numbers that have that property.

### 1.2 The Frege-Russell definition of the natural numbers

Frege (1884) and Russell (1903) suggested that the simpler concept “natural number” also admits analysis in terms of sets. The simplest application of natural numbers is to count finite sets. We are all familiar with finite collections with 1,2,3, … elements. Additional sophistication may acquaint us with the empty set with 0 elements.

Now consider the number 3. It is associated with a particular property of finite sets: having three elements. With that property it may be argued that we may naturally associate an object, the collection of all sets with three elements. It seems reasonable to identify this set as the number 3. This definition might seem circular (3 is the set of all sets with 3 elements?) but can actually be put on a firm, non-circular footing.

Define 0 as the set whose only element is the empty set. Let
*A* be any set; define *A* + 1 as the collection of all
sets *a* ∪ {*x*} where *a* ∈ *A*
and *x* ∉ *a* (all sets obtained by adding a new
element to an element of *A*). Then 0 + 1 is clearly the set we
want to understand as 1, 1 + 1 is the set we want to understand as 2,
2 + 1 is the set we want to understand as 3, and so forth.

We can go further and define the set **N** of natural
numbers. 0 is a natural number and if *A* is a natural number,
so is *A* + 1. If a set *S* contains 0 and is closed
under successor, it will contain all natural numbers (this is one form
of the principle of mathematical induction). Define **N**
as the intersection of all sets *I* which contain 0 and contain
*A* + 1 whenever *A* is in *I* and *A* + 1
exists. One might doubt that there is any inductive set, but consider
the set *V* of all *x* such that *x* = *x*
(the universe). There is a formal possibility that *V* itself
is finite, in which case there would be a last natural number
{*V*}; one usually assumes an Axiom of Infinity to rule out
such possibilities.

## 2. Naive set theory

In the previous section, we took a completely intuitive approach to our applications of set theory. We assumed that the reader would go along with certain ideas of what sets are like.

What are the identity conditions on sets? It seems entirely in accord
with common sense to stipulate that a set is precisely determined by
its elements: two sets *A* and *B* are the same if for
every *x*, either *x* ∈ *A* and *x*
∈ *B* or *x* ∉ *A* and *x*
∉ *B*:

A=B↔ ∀x(x∈A↔x∈B)

This is called the *axiom of extensionality*.

It also seems reasonable to suppose that there are things which are
not sets, but which are capable of being members of sets (such objects
are often called *atoms* or *urelements*). These objects
will have no elements (like the empty set) but will be distinct from
one another and from the empty set. This suggests the alternative
weaker axiom of extensionality (perhaps actually closer to common
sense),

[set(A) & set(B) & ∀x(x∈A↔x∈B)] →A=B

with an accompanying axiom of sethood

x∈A→ set(A)

What sets are there? The simplest collections are given by enumeration
(the set {*Tom*, *Dick*, *Harry*} of men I see over
there, or (more abstractly) the set {−2, 2} of square roots of 4. But
even for finite sets it is often more convenient to give a defining
property for elements of the set: consider the set of all grandmothers
who have a legal address in Boise, Idaho; this is a finite collection
but it is inconvenient to list its members. The general idea is that
for any property *P*, there is a set of all objects with
property *P*. This can be formalized as follows: For any formula
*P*(*x*), there is a set *A* (the variable
*A* should not be free in *P*(*x*)) such that

∀x(x∈A↔P(x)).

This is called the *axiom of comprehension*. If we have weak
extensionality and a sethood predicate, we might want to say

∃A(set(A) & ∀x(x∈A↔P(x)))

The theory with these two axioms of extensionality and comprehension
(usually without sethood predicates) is called *naive set
theory*.

It is clear that comprehension allows the definition of finite sets:
our set of men {*Tom*, *Dick*, *Harry*} can also
be written {*x* | *x* = *Tom*
∨
*x* =
*Dick*
∨
*x* = *Harry*}. It also appears to
allow for the definition of *infinite* sets, such as the set
({*x* ∈ **Q** | *x* < 0
∨
*x*^{2} < 2} mentioned above in our definition of
the square root of 2.

Unfortunately, naive set theory is inconsistent. Russell gave the
most convincing proof of this, although his was not the first paradox
to be discovered: let *P*(*x*) be the property
*x* ∉ *x*. By the axiom of comprehension, there is
a set *R* such that for any *x*, *x* ∈
*R* iff *x* ∉ *x*. But it follows
immediately that *R* ∈ *R* iff *R* ∉
*R*, which is a contradiction.

It must be noted that our formalization of naive set theory is an anachronism. Cantor did not fully formalize his set theory, so it cannot be determined whether his system falls afoul of the paradoxes (he did not think so, and there are some who agree with him now). Frege formalized his system more explicitly, but his system was not precisely a set theory in the modern sense: the most that can be said is that his system is inconsistent, for basically the reason given here, and a full account of the differences between Frege's system and our “naive set theory” is beside the point (though historically certainly interesting).

### 2.1 The other paradoxes of naive set theory

Two other paradoxes of naive set theory are usually mentioned, the paradox of Burali-Forti (1897) — which has historical precedence — and the paradox of Cantor. To review these other paradoxes is a convenient way to review as well what the early set theorists were up to, so we will do it. Our formal presentation of these paradoxes is anachronistic; we are interested in their mathematical content, but not necessarily in the exact way that they were originally presented.

Cantor in his theory of sets was concerned with defining notions of infinite cardinal number and infinite ordinal number. Consideration of the largest ordinal number gave rise to the Burali-Forti paradox, and consideration of the largest cardinal number gave rise to the Cantor paradox.

Infinite ordinals can be presented in naive set theory as isomorphism
classes of well-orderings (a well-ordering is a linear order ≤ with
the property that any nonempty subset of its domain has a ≤-least
element). We use reflexive, antisymmetric, transitive relations ≤
as our linear orders rather than the associated irreflexive,
asymmetric, transitive relations <, because this allows us to
distinguish between the ordinal numbers 0 and 1 (Russell and Whitehead
took the latter approach and were unable to define an ordinal number 1
in their *Principia Mathematica*).

There is a natural order on ordinal numbers (induced by the fact that of any two well-orderings, at least one will be isomorphic to an initial segment of the other) and it is straightforward to show that it is a well-ordering. Since it is a well-ordering, it belongs to an isomorphism class (an ordinal number!) Ω.

It is also straightforward to show that the order type of the natural order on the ordinals restricted to the ordinals less than α is α: the order on {0, 1, 2} is of order type 3, the order on the finite ordinals {0, 1, 2, …} is the first infinite ordinal ω, and so forth.

But then the order type of the ordinals < Ω is Ω
itself, which means that the order type of *all* the ordinals
(including Ω) is “greater” — but Ω was defined as the
order type of all the ordinals and should not be greater than
itself!

This paradox was presented first (Cantor was aware of it) and Cantor did not think that it invalidated his system.

Cantor defined two sets as having the same cardinal number if there was a bijection between them. This is of course simply common sense in the finite realm; his originality lay in extending it to the infinite realm and refusing to shy from the apparently paradoxical results. In the infinite realm, cardinal and ordinal number are not isomorphic notions as they are in the finite realm: a well-ordering of order type ω (say, the usual order on the natural numbers) and a well-ordering of order type ω + ω (say, the order on the natural numbers which puts all odd numbers before all even numbers and puts the sets of odd and even numbers in their usual order) represent different ordinal numbers but their fields (being the same set!) are certainly of the same size. Such “paradoxes” as the apparent equinumerousness of the natural numbers and the perfect squares (noted by Galileo) and the one-to-one correspondence between the points on concentric circles of different radii, noted since the Middle Ages, were viewed as matter-of-fact evidence for equinumerousness of particular infinite sets by Cantor.

Novel with Cantor was the demonstration (1872) that there are infinite
sets of different sizes according to this criterion. Cantor's
paradox, for which an original reference is difficult to find, is an
immediate corollary of this result. If *A* is a set, define the
*power set* of *A* as the set of all subsets of
*A*: ℘(*A*) = {*B* |
∀*x*(*x* ∈ *B* → *x*
∈ *A*)}. Cantor proved that there can be no bijection
between *A* and ℘(*A*) for any set
*A*. Suppose that *f* is a bijection from *A* to
℘(*A*). Define *C* as {*a*
∈ *A* | *a* ∉
*f*(*a*)}. Because *f* is a bijection there must
be *c* such that *f*(*c*) = *C*. Now we
notice that *c* ∈ *C* ↔ *c* ∉
*f* (*c*) = *C*, which is a contradiction.

Cantor's theorem just proved shows that for any set *A*, there
is a set ℘(*A*) which is larger. Cantor's
paradox arises if we try to apply Cantor's theorem to the set of all
sets (or to the universal set, if we suppose (with common sense) that
not all objects are sets). If *V* is the universal set, then
℘(*V*), the power set of the universal set
(the set of all sets) must have larger cardinality than
*V*. But clearly no set can be larger in cardinality than the
set which contains everything!

Cantor's response to both of these paradoxes was telling (and can be
formalized in *ZFC* or in the related systems which admit
proper classes, as we will see below). He essentially reinvoked the
classical objections to infinite sets on a higher level. Both the
largest cardinal and the largest ordinal arise from considering the
very largest collections (such as the universe *V*). Cantor
drew a distinction between legitimate mathematical infinities such as
the countable infinity of the natural numbers (with its associated
cardinal number
ℵ_{0}
and many ordinal numbers ω, ω + 1, …, ω +
ω, …), the larger infinity of the continuum, and further
infinities derived from these, which he called *transfinite*,
and what he called the Absolute Infinite, the infinity of the
collection containing everything and of such related notions as the
largest cardinal and the largest ordinal. In this he followed
St. Augustine (*De Civitate Dei*) who argued in late classical
times that the infinite collection of natural numbers certainly
existed as an actual infinity because God was aware of each and every
natural number, but because God's knowledge encompassed all the
natural numbers their totality was somehow finite in His sight. The
fact that his defense of set theory against the Burali-Forti and
Cantor paradoxes was subsequently successfully formalized in
*ZFC* and the related class systems leads some to believe that
Cantor's own set theory was not implicated in the paradoxes.

## 3. Typed theories

An early response to the paradoxes of set theory (by Russell, who
discovered one of them) was the development of type theory (see the
appendix to Russell's *The Principles of Mathematics* (1903) or
*Principia Mathematica* (1967).

The simplest theory of this kind is obtained as follows. We admit
sorts of object indexed by the natural numbers (this is purely a
typographical convenience; no actual reference to natural numbers is
involved). Type 0 is inhabited by “individuals” with no specified
structure. Type 1 is inhabited by sets of type 0 objects, and in
general type *n* + 1 is inhabited by sets of type *n*
objects.

The type system is enforced by the grammar of the language. Atomic
sentences are equations or membership statements, and they are only
well-formed if they take one of the forms *x*^{n} =
*y*^{n} or *x*^{n} ∈
*y*^{n+1}.

The axioms of extensionality of *TST* take the form

A^{n+1}=B^{n+1}↔ ∀x^{n}(x^{n}∈A^{n+1}↔x^{n}∈B^{n+1});

there is a separate axiom for each *n*.

The axioms of comprehension of *TST* take the form (for any
choice of a type *n*, a formula φ, and a variable
*A*^{n+1} not free in φ)

∃A^{n+1}∀x^{n}(x^{n}∈A^{n+1}↔ φ)

It is interesting to observe that the axioms of *TST* are
precisely analogous to those of naive set theory.

This is not the original type theory of Russell. Leaving aside
Russell's use of “propositional functions” instead of classes and
relations, the system of *Principia Mathematica* (1967),
hereinafter *PM*)) fails to be a set theory because it has
separate types for relations (propositional functions of arity >
1). It was not until Norbert Wiener observed in 1914 that it was
possible to define the ordered pair as a set (his definition of <
*x*, *y* > was not the current
{{*x*},{*x*, *y*}}, due to Kuratowski (1921), but
{{{*x*}, ∅},{{*y*}}}) that it became clear that it
is possible to code relation types into set types. Russell frequently
said in English that relations could be understood as sets of pairs
(or longer tuples) but he had no implementation of this idea (in fact,
he defined ordered pairs as relations in *PM* rather than the
now usual reverse!) For a discussion of the history of this
simplified type theory, see Wang (1970).

Further, Russell was worried about circularity in definitions of sets
(which he believed to be the cause of the paradoxes) to the extent
that he did not permit a set of a given type to be defined by a
condition which involved quantification over the same type or a higher
type. This *predicativity* restriction weakens the mathematical
power of set theory to an extreme degree.

In Russell's system, the restriction is implemented by characterizing
a type not only by the type of its elements but by an additional
integer parameter called its “order”. For any object with elements,
the order of its type is higher than the order of the type of its
elements. Further, the comprehension axiom is restricted so that the
condition defining a set of a type of order *n* can contain
parameters only of types with order ≤ *n* and quantifiers
only over types with order < *n*. Russell's system is
further complicated by the fact that it is not a theory of sets, as we
noted above, because it also contains relation types (this makes a
full account of it here inappropriate). Even if we restrict to types
of sets, a simple linear hierarchy of types is not possible if types
have order, because each type has “power set” types of each order
higher than its own.

We present a typed theory of sets with predicativity restrictions (we have seen this in work of Marcel Crabbé, but it may be older). In this system, the types do not have orders, but Russell's ramified type theory with orders (complete with relation types) can be interpreted in it (a technical result of which we do not give an account here).

The syntax of predicative *TST* is the same as that of the
original system. The axioms of extensionality are also the same. The
axioms of comprehension of predicative *TST* take the form (for
any choice of a type *n*, a formula φ, and a variable
*A*^{n+1} not free in φ, satisfying the
restriction that no parameter of type *n* + 2 or greater
appears in φ, nor does any quantifier over type *n* + 1 or
higher appear in φ)

∃A^{n+1}∀x^{n}(x^{n}∈A^{n+1}↔ φ)

Predicative mathematics does not permit unrestricted mathematical
induction: In impredicative type theory, we can define 0 and the
“successor” *A*^{+} of a set just as we did above in
naive set theory (in a given type *n*) then define the set of
natural numbers:

N^{n+1}= {m^{n}| ∀A^{n+1}[[0^{n}∈A^{n+1}& ∀B^{n}(B^{n}∈A^{n+1}→ (B^{+})^{n}∈A^{n+1})] →m^{n}∈A^{n+1}]}

Russell would object that the set
**N**^{n+1} is being “defined” in terms of facts
about *all* sets *A*^{n+1}: something is a type
*n* + 1 natural number just in case it belongs to all type
*n* + 1 inductive sets. But one of the type *n* + 1 sets
in terms of which it is being “defined” is
**N**^{n+1} itself. (Independently of
predicativist scruples, one does need an Axiom of Infinity to ensure
that all natural numbers exist; this is frequently added to
*TST*, as is the Axiom of Choice).

For similar reasons, predicative mathematics does not permit the Least Upper Bound Axiom of analysis (the proof of this axiom in a set theoretical implementation of the reals as Dedekind cuts fails for the same kind of reason).

Russell solved these problems in *PM* by adopting an Axiom of
Reducibility which in effect eliminated the predicativity
restrictions, but in later comments on *PM* he advocated
abandoning this axiom.

Most mathematicians are not predicativists; in our opinion the best
answer to predicativist objections is to deny that comprehension
axioms can properly be construed as definitions (though we admit that
we seem to find ourselves frequently speaking loosely of φ as the
condition which “defines” {*x* | φ}).

It should be noted that it is possible to do a significant amount of
mathematics while obeying predicativist scruples. The set of natural
numbers cannot be defined in the predicative version of *TST*,
but the set of singletons of natural numbers can be defined and can be
used to prove some instances of induction (enough to do quite a bit of
elementary mathematics). Similarly, a version of the Dedekind
construction of the real numbers can be carried out, in which many
important instances of the least upper bound axiom will be
provable.

Type theories are still in use, mostly in theoretical computer
science, but these are type theories of *functions*, with
complexity similar to or greater than the complexity of the system of
*PM*, and fortunately outside the scope of this study.

## 4. Zermelo set theory and its refinements

In this section we discuss the development of the usual set theory
*ZFC*. It did not spring up full-grown like Athena from the
head of Zeus!

### 4.1 Zermelo set theory

The original theory *Z* of Zermelo (1908) had the following
axioms:

Extensionality:Sets with the same elements are equal. (The original version appears to permit non-sets (atoms) which all have no elements, much as in my discussion above under naive set theory).

Pairing:For any objectsaandb, there is a set {a,b} = {x|x=a∨x=b}. (the original axiom also provided the empty set and singleton sets).

Union:For any setA, there is a set ∪A= {x| ∃y(x∈y&y∈A)}. The union ofAcontains all the elements of elements ofA.

Power Set:For any setA, there is a set ℘(A) = {x| ∀y(y∈x→y∈A)}. The power set ofAis the set of all subsets ofA.

Infinity:There is an infinite set. Zermelo's original formulation asserted the existence of a set containing ∅ and closed under the singleton operation: {∅ ,{∅},{{∅}}, …}. It is now more usual to assert the existence of a set which contains ∅ and is closed under the von Neumann successor operationxx∪ {x}. (Neither of these axioms implies the other in the presence of the other axioms, though they yield theories with the same mathematical strength).

Separation:For any propertyP(x) of objects and any setA, there is a set {x∈A|P(x)} which contains all the elements ofAwith the propertyP.

Choice:For every setCof pairwise disjoint nonempty sets, there is a set whose intersection with each element ofChas exactly one element.

We note that we do not need an axiom asserting the existence of ∅ (which is frequently included in axiom lists as it was in Zermelo's original axiom set): the existence of any object (guaranteed by logic unless we use a free logic) along with separation will do the trick, and even if we use a free logic the set provided by Infinity will serve (the axiom of Infinity can be reframed to say that there is a set which contains all sets with no elements (without presupposing that there are any) and is closed under the desired successor operation).

Every axiom of Zermelo set theory except Choice is an axiom of naive set theory. Zermelo chose enough axioms so that the mathematical applications of set theory could be carried out and restricted the axioms sufficiently that the paradoxes could not apparently be derived.

The most general comprehension axiom of *Z* is the axiom of
Separation. If we try to replicate the Russell paradox by constructing
the set *R*′ = {*x* ∈ *A* | *x*
∉ *x*}, we discover that *R*′ ∈
*R*′ ↔ *R*′ ∈
*A* & *R*′ ∉ *R*′, from
which we deduce *R*′ ∉ *A*. For any set
*A*, we can construct a set which does not belong to
it. Another way to put this is that *Z* proves that there is no
universal set: if we had the universal set *V*, we would have
naive comprehension, because we could define {*x* |
*P*(*x*)} as {*x* ∈ *V* |
*P*(*x*)} for any property *P*(*x*),
including the fatal *x* ∉ *x*.

In order to apply the axiom of separation, we need to have some sets
*A* from which to carve out subsets using properties. The other
axioms allow the construction of a lot of sets (all sets needed for
classical mathematics outside of set theory, though not all of the
sets that even Cantor had constructed with apparent safety).

The elimination of the universal set seems to arouse resistance in some quarters (many of the alternative set theories recover it, and the theories with sets and classes recover at least a universe of all sets). On the other hand, the elimination of the universal set seems to go along with Cantor's idea that the problem with the paradoxes was that they involved Absolutely Infinite collections — purported “sets” that are too large.

### 4.2 From Zermelo set theory to *ZFC*

Zermelo set theory came to be modified in certain ways.

The formulation of the axiom of separation was made explicit: “for
each formula φ of the first-order language with equality and
membership, {*x* ∈ *A* | φ} exists.” Zermelo's
original formulation referred more vaguely to properties in general
(and Zermelo himself seems to have objected to the modern formulation
as too restrictive).

The non-sets are usually abandoned (so the formulation of
Extensionality is stronger) though *ZFA* (Zermelo-Frankel set
theory with atoms) was used in the first independence proofs for the
Axiom of Choice.

The axiom scheme of Replacement was added by Frankel to make it
possible to construct larger sets (even
ℵ_{ω}
cannot be proved to exist in Zermelo set theory). The basic idea is
that any collection the same size as a set is a set, which can be
logically formulated as follows: if φ(*x*,*y*) is a
functional formula
∀*x*∀*y*∀*z*[(φ(*x*,*y*)
& φ(*x*,*z*)) →
*y* = *z*] and *A* is a set then there is a set
{*y* | ∃*x* ∈
*A*(φ(*x*,*y*))}.

The axiom scheme of Foundation was added as a definite conception of
what the universe of sets is like was formed. The idea of the
cumulative hierarchy of sets is that we construct sets in a sequence
of stages indexed by the ordinals: at stage 0, the empty set is
constructed; at stage α + 1, all subsets of the set of stage
α sets are constructed; at a limit stage λ, the union of
all stages with index less than λ is constructed. Replacement
is important for the implementation of this idea, as *Z* only
permits one to construct sets belonging to the stages
*V*_{n} and *V*_{ω
+n} for *n* a natural number (we use the notation
*V*_{α} for the collection of all sets
constructed at stage α). The intention of the Foundation Axiom
is to assert that every set belongs to some
*V*_{α} ; the commonest formulation is the
mysterious assertion that for any nonempty set *A*, there is an
element *x* of *A* such that *x* is disjoint from
*A*. To see that this is at least implied by Foundation,
consider that there must be a smallest α such that *A*
meets *V*_{α}, and any *x* in this
*V*_{α} will have elements (if any) only of
smaller rank and so not in *A*.

Zermelo set theory has difficulties with the cumulative hierarchy. The
usual form of the Zermelo axioms (or Zermelo's original form) does not
prove the existence of *V*_{α} as a set unless
α is finite. If the Axiom of Infinity is reformulated to assert
the existence of *V*_{ω} , then the ranks proved
to exist as sets by Zermelo set theory are exactly those which appear
in the natural model *V*_{ω+ω} of this
theory. Also, Zermelo set theory does not prove the existence of
transitive closures of sets, which makes it difficult to assign ranks
to sets in general. Zermelo set theory plus the assertion that every
set belongs to an ordinal rank which is a set implies Foundation, the
existence of expected ordinal ranks, and the existence of transitive
closures, and can be interpreted in Zermelo set theory without
additional assumptions.

The Axiom of Choice is an object of suspicion to some mathematicians
because it is not constructive. It has become customary to indicate
when a proof in set theory uses Choice, although most mathematicians
accept it as an axiom. The Axiom of Replacement is sometimes replaced
with the Axiom of Collection, which asserts, for any formula
φ(*x*,*y*):

∀x∈A∃y(φ(x,y)) → ∃C∀x∈A∃y∈C(φ(x,y))

Note that φ here does not need to be functional;
if for every *x* ∈ *A*, there are some *y*'s
such that φ(*x*, *y*), there is a set such that for
every *x* ∈ *A*, there is *y* *in that
set* such that φ(*x*, *y*). One way to build
this set is to take, for each *x* ∈ *A*, all the
*y*'s of minimal rank such that φ(*x*, *y*)
and put them in *C*. In the presence of all other axioms of
*ZFC*, Replacement and Collection are equivalent; when the
axiomatics is perturbed (or when the logic is perturbed, as in
intuitionistic set theory) the difference becomes important. The Axiom
of Foundation is equivalent to ∈-Induction here but not in
other contexts: ∈-Induction is the assertion that for any
formula φ:

∀

x((∀y∈x(φ(y)) → φ(x)) → ∀xφ(x)

i.e., anything which is true of any set if it is true of all its elements is true of every set without exception.

### 4.3 Critique of Zermelo set theory

A common criticism of Zermelo set theory is that it is an *ad
hoc* selection of axioms chosen to avoid paradox, and we have no
reason to believe that it actually achieves this end. We believe such
objections to be unfounded, for two reasons. The first is that the
theory of types (which is the result of a principled single
modification of naive set theory) is easily shown to be precisely
equivalent in consistency strength and expressive power to *Z*
with the restriction that all quantifiers in the formulas φ in
instances of separation must be bounded in a set; this casts doubt on
the idea that the choice of axioms in *Z* is particularly
arbitrary. The fact that the von Neumann-Gödel-Bernays class
theory (discussed below) turns out to be a conservative extension of
*ZFC* suggests that full *ZFC* is a precise formulation
of Cantor's ideas about the Absolute Infinite (and so not arbitrary).
Further, the introduction of the Foundation Axiom identifies the set
theories of this class as the theories of a particular class of
structures (the well-founded sets) of which the Zermelo axioms
certainly seem to hold (whether Replacement holds so evidently is
another matter).

These theories are frequently extended with large cardinal axioms (the existence of inaccessible cardinals, Mahlo cardinals, weakly compact cardinals, measurable cardinals and so forth). These do not to us signal a new kind of set theory, but represent answers to the question as to how large the universe of Zermelo-style set theory is.

The choice of Zermelo set theory (leaving aside whether one goes on to
*ZFC*) rules out the use of equivalence classes of equinumerous
sets as cardinals (and so the use of the Frege natural numbers) or the
use of equivalence classes of well-orderings as ordinals. There is no
difficulty with the use of the Dedekind cut formulation of the reals
(once the rationals have been introduced). Instead of the equivalence
class formulations of cardinal and ordinal numbers, the *von
Neumann ordinals* are used: a von Neumann ordinal is a transitive
set (all of its elements are among its subsets) which is well-ordered
by membership. The order type of a well-ordering is the von Neumann
ordinal of the same length (the axiom of Replacement is needed to
prove that every set well-ordering has an order type; this can fail to
be true in Zermelo set theory, where the von Neumann ordinal ω +
ω cannot be proven to exist but there are certainly
well-orderings of this and longer types). The cardinal number
|*A*| ia defined as the smallest order type of a well-ordering
of *A* (this requires Choice to work; without choice, we can
use Foundation to define the cardinal of a set *A* as the set
of all sets equinumerous with *A* and belonging to the first
*V*_{α} containing sets equinumerous with
*A*). This is one respect in which Cantor's ideas do not agree
with the modern conception; he appears to have thought that he could
define at least cardinal numbers as equivalence classes (or at least
that is one way to interpret what he says), although such equivalence
classes would of course be Absolutely Infinite.

### 4.4 Weak variations and theories with hypersets

Some weaker subsystems of *ZFC* are used. Zermelo set theory,
the system *Z* described above, is still studied. The further
restriction of the axiom of separation to formulas in which all
quantifiers are bounded in sets (Δ_{0} separation) yields
“bounded Zermelo set theory” or “Mac Lane set theory”, so called
because it has been advocated as a foundation for mathematics by
Saunders Mac Lane (1986). It is interesting to observe that Mac Lane
set theory is precisely equivalent in consistency strength and
expressive power to *TST* with the Axiom of
Infinity. *Z* is strictly stronger than Mac Lane set theory;
the former theory proves the consistency of the latter. See Mathias
(2001) for an extensive discussion.

The set theory *KPU* (Kripke-Platek set theory with urelements,
for which see Barwise (1975)) is of interest for technical reasons in
model theory. The axioms of *KPU* are the weak Extensionality
which allows urelements, Pairing, Union, Δ_{0}
separation, Δ_{0} collection, and ∈-induction for
arbitrary formulas. Note the absence of Power Set. The technical
advantage of *KPU* is that all of its constructions are
“absolute” in a suitable sense. This makes the theory suitable for the
development of an extension of recursion theory to sets.

The dominance of *ZFC* is nowhere more evident than in the
great enthusiasm and sense of a new departure found in reactions to
the very slight variation of this kind of set theory embodied in
versions of *ZFC* without the foundation axiom. It should be
noted that the Foundation Axiom was not part of the original system!

We describe two theories out of a range of possible theories of
*hypersets* (Zermelo-Frankel set theory without foundation). A
source for theories of this kind is (Aczel 1988).

In the following paragraphs, we will use the term “graph” for a
relation, and “extensional graph” for a relation *R* satisfying
(∀*y*,*z* ∈
*field*(*R*)[∀*x*(*xRy* ≡
*xRz*) → *y* = *z*]. A decoration of a graph
*G* is a function *f* with the property that
*f*(*x*) = {*f*(*y*) |
*yGx*} for all *x* in the
field of *G*. In *ZFC*, all well-founded relations have
unique decorations, and non-well-founded relations have no
decorations. Aczel proposed his Anti-Foundation Axiom: *every set
graph has a unique decoration*. Maurice Boffa considered a
stronger axiom: every partial, injective decoration of an extensional
set graph *G* whose domain contains the *G*-preimages of
all its elements can be extended to an injective decoration of all of
*G*.

The Aczel system is distinct from the Boffa system in having fewer
ill-founded objects. For example, the Aczel theory proves that there
is just one object which is its own sole element, while the Boffa
theory provides a proper class of such objects. The Aczel system has
been especially popular, and we ourselves witnessed a great deal of
enthusiasm for this subversion of the cumulative hierarchy. We are
doubtless not the only ones to point this out, but we did notice and
point out to others that at least the Aczel theory has a perfectly
obvious analogue of the cumulative hierarchy. If
*A*_{α} is a rank, the successor
rank *A*_{α +1} will consist of all
those sets which can be associated with graphs *G* with a
selected point *t* with all elements of the field of *G*
taken from *A*_{α}. The zero and
limit ranks are constructed just as in *ZFC*. Every set belongs
to an *A*_{α} for α less than
or equal to the cardinality of its transitive closure. (It seems
harder to impose rank on the world of the Boffa theory, though it can
be done: the proper class of self-singletons is an obvious difficulty,
to begin with!).

It is true (and has been the object of applications in computer
science) that it is useful to admit reflexive structures for some
purposes. The kind of reflexivity permitted by Aczel's theory has been
useful for some such applications. However, such structures are
modelled in well-founded set theory (using relations other than
membership) with hardly more difficulty, and the reflexivity admitted
by Aczel's theory (or even by a more liberal theory like that of
Boffa) doesn't come near the kind of non-well-foundedness found in
genuinely alternative set theories, especially those with universal
set. These theories are close variants of the usual theory
*ZFC*, caused by perturbing the last axiom to be added to this
system historically (although, to be fair, the Axiom of Foundation is
the one which arguably defines the unique structure which the usual
set theory is about; the anti-foundation axioms thus invite us to
contemplate different, even if closely related, universal
structures).

## 5. Theories with classes

### 5.1 Class theory over *ZFC*

Even those mathematicians who accepted the Zermelo-style set theories as the standard (most of them!) often found themselves wanting to talk about “all sets”, or “all ordinals”, or similar concepts.

Von Neumann (who actually formulated a theory of functions, not sets),
Gödel, and Bernays developed closely related systems which admit,
in addition to the sets found in *ZFC*, general collections of
these sets. (In Hallett (1984), it is argued that the system of von
Neumann was the first system in which the Axiom of Replacement
was implemented correctly (there were technical problems with
Fraenkel's formulation), so it may actually be the first
implementation of *ZFC*.)

We present a theory of this kind. Its objects are
*classes*. Among the classes we identify those which are
elements as sets.

Axiom of extensionality:Classes with the same elements are the same.

Definition:A classxis asetjust in case there is a classysuch thatx∈y. A class which is not a set is said to be a proper class.

Axiom of class comprehension:For any formula φ(x) which involves quantification only over all sets (not over all classes), there is a class {x| φ(x)} which contains exactly thosesetsxfor which φ(x) is true.

The axiom scheme of class comprehension with quantification only over
sets admits a finite axiomatization (a finite selection of formulas
φ (most with parameters) suffices) and was historically first
presented in this way. It is an immediate consequence of class
comprehension that the Russell class {*x* | *x* ∉
*x*} cannot be a set (so there is at least one proper
class).

Axiom of limitation of size:A classCis proper if and only if there is a class bijection betweenCand the universe.

This elegant axiom is essentially due to von Neumann. A class bijection is a class of ordered pairs; there might be pathology here if we did not have enough pairs as sets, but other axioms do provide for their existence. It is interesting to observe that this axiom implies Replacement (a class which is the same size as a set cannot be the same size as the universe) and, surprisingly, implies Choice (the von Neumann ordinals make up a proper class essentially by the Burali-Forti paradox, so the universe must be the same size as the class of ordinals, and the class bijection between the universe and the ordinals allows us to define a global well-ordering of the universe, whose existence immediately implies Choice).

Although Class Comprehension and Limitation of Size appear to tell us
exactly what classes there are and what sets there are, more axioms
are required to make our universe large enough. These can be taken to
be the axioms of *Z* (other than extensionality and choice,
which are not needed): the sethood of pairs of sets, unions of sets,
power sets of sets, and the existence of an infinite set are enough to
give us the world of *ZFC*. Foundation is usually added. The
resulting theory is a conservative extension of *ZFC*: it
proves all the theorems of *ZFC* about sets, and it does not
prove any theorem about sets which is not provable in
*ZFC*. For those with qualms about choice (or about global
choice), Limitation of Size can be restricted to merely assert that
the image of a set under a class function is a set.

We have two comments about this. First, the mental furniture of set theorists does seem to include proper classes, though usually it is important to them that all talk of proper classes can be explained away (the proper classes are in some sense “virtual”). Second, this theory (especially the version with the strong axiom of Limitation of Size) seems to capture the intuition of Cantor about the Absolute Infinite.

A stronger theory with classes, but still essentially a version of
standard set theory, is the Kelley-Morse set theory in which Class
Comprehension is strengthened to allow quantification over all classes
in the formulas defining classes. Kelley-Morse set theory is not
finitely axiomatizable, and it is stronger than *ZFC* in the
sense that it allows a proof of the consistency of *ZFC*.

### 5.2 Ackermann set theory

The next theory we present was actually embedded in the set
theoretical proposals of Paul Finsler, which were (taken as a whole)
incoherent (see the notes on Finsler set theory available in the Other
Internet Resources). Ackermann later (and apparently independently)
presented it again. It is to all appearances a different theory from
the standard one (it is our first genuine “alternative set theory”)
but it turns out to be essentially the same theory as *ZF* (and
choice can be added to make it essentially the same as
*ZFC*).

Ackermann set theory is a theory of *classes* in which some
classes are *sets*, but there is no simple definition of which
classes are sets (in fact, the whole power of the theory is that the
notion of set is indefinable!)

All objects are classes. The primitive notions are equality, membership and sethood. The axioms are

Axiom of extensionality:Classes with the same elements are equal.

Axiom of class comprehension:For any formula φ, there is a class {x∈V| φ (x)} whose elements are exactly the setsxsuch that φ(x) (Vhere denotes the class of all sets). [But note that it is not the case here that all elements of classes are sets].

Axiom of elements:Any element of a set is a set.

Axiom of subsets:Any subset of a set is a set.

Axiom of set comprehension:For any formula φ (x) which does not mention the sethood predicate and in which all free variables other thanxdenote sets, and which further has the property that φ(x) is only true of setsx, the class {x| φ} (which exists by Class Comprehension since all suitablexare sets) is a set.

One can conveniently add axioms of Foundation and Choice to this system.

To see the point (mainly, to understand what Set Comprehension says) it is a good idea to go through some derivations.

The formula *x* = *a*
∨
*x* = *b*
(where *a* and *b* are sets) does not mention sethood,
has only the sets *a* and *b* as parameters, and is true
only of sets. Thus it defines a set, and Pairing is true for sets.

The formula ∃*y*(*x* ∈ *y* &
*y* ∈ *a*), where *a* is a set, does not
mention sethood, has only the set *a* as a parameter, and is
true only of sets by the Axiom of Elements (any witness *y*
belongs to the set *a*, so *y* is a set, and *x*
belongs to the set *y*, so *x* is a set). Thus Union is
true for sets.

The formula ∀*y*(*y* ∈ *x*
→ *y* ∈ *a*), where *a* is a
set, does not mention sethood, has only the set *a* as a
parameter, and is true only of sets by the Axiom of Subsets. Thus
Power Set is true for sets.

The big surprise is that this system proves Infinity. The formula
*x* ≠ *x* clearly defines a set, the empty set
∅. Consider the formula

∀I[∅ ∈I& ∀y(y∈I→y∪{y} ∈I) →x∈I]

This formula does not
mention sethood and has no parameters (or just the set parameter
∅). The class *V* of all sets has ∅ as a member
and contains *y* ∪ {*y*} if it contains *y*
by Pairing and Union for sets (already shown). Thus any *x*
satisfying this formula is a set, whence the extension of the formula
is a set (clearly the usual set of von Neumann natural numbers). So
Infinity is true in the sets of Ackermann set theory.

It is possible (but harder) to prove Replacement as well in the realm
of well-founded sets (which can be the entire universe of sets if
Foundation for classes is added as an axiom). It is demonstrable that
the theorems of Ackermann set theory about well-founded sets are
exactly the theorems of *ZF* (Levy 1959, Reinhardt 1970).

We attempt to motivate this theory (in terms of the cumulative hierarchy). Think of classes as collections which merely exist potentially. The sets are those classes which actually get constructed. Extensionality for classes seems unproblematic. All collections of the actual sets could have been constructed by constructing one more stage of the cumulative hierarchy: this justifies class comprehension. Elements of actual sets are actual sets; subcollections of actual sets are actual sets; these do not seem problematic. Finally, we assert that any collection of classes which is defined without reference to the realm of actual sets, which is defined in terms of specific objects which are actual, and which turns out only to contain actual elements is actual. When one gets one's mind around this last assertion, it can seem reasonable. A particular thing to note about such a definition is that it is “absolute”: the collection of all actual sets is a proper class and not itself an actual set, because we are not committed to stopping the construction of actual sets at any particular point; but the elements of a collection satisfying the conditions of set comprehension do not depend on how many potential collections we make actual (this is why the actuality predicate is not allowed to appear in the “defining” formula).

It may be a minority opinion, but we believe (after some
contemplation) that the Ackermann axioms have their own distinctive
philosophical motivation which deserves consideration, particularly
since it turns out to yield basically the same theory as *ZF*
from an apparently quite different starting point.

Ackermann set theory actually proves that there are classes which have
non-set classes as elements; the difference between sets and classes
provably cannot be as in von Neumann-Gödel-Bernays class
theory. A quick proof of this concerns ordinals. There is a proper
class von Neumann ordinal Ω, the class of all set von Neumann
ordinals. We can prove the existence of Ω + 1 using set
comprehension: if Ω were the last ordinal, then “*x* is a
von Neumann ordinal with a successor” would be a predicate not
mentioning sethood, with no parameters (so all parameters sets), and
true only of sets. But this would make the class of all set ordinals a
set, and the class of all set ordinals is Ω itself, which would
lead to the Burali-Forti paradox. So Ω + 1 must exist, and is a
proper class with the proper class Ω as an element.

There is a meta-theorem of *ZF* called the Reflection Principle
which asserts that any first-order assertion which is true of the
universe *V* is also true of some set. This means that for any
particular proof in *ZF*, there is a set *M* which might
as well be the universe (because any proof uses only finitely many
axioms). A suitable such set *M* can be construed as the
universe of sets and the actual universe *V* can be construed
as the universe of classes. The set *M* has the closure
properties asserted in Elements and Subsets if it is a limit rank; it
can be chosen to have as many of the closure properties asserted in
Set Comprehension (translated into terms of *M*) as a proof in
Ackermann set theory requires. This machinery is what is used to show
that Ackermann set theory proves nothing about sets that *ZF*
cannot prove: one translates a proof in Ackermann set theory into a
proof in *ZFC* using the Reflection Principle.

## 6. New Foundations and related systems

### 6.1 The definition of *NF*

We have alluded already to the fact that the simple typed theory of
sets *TST* can be shown to be equivalent to an untyped theory
(Mac Lane set theory, aka bounded Zermelo set theory). We briefly
indicate how to do this: choose any map *f* in the model which
is an injection with domain the set of singletons of type 0 objects
and range included in type 1 (the identity on singletons of type 0
objects is an example). Identify each type 0 object
*x*^{0} with the type 1 object *f*
({*x*^{0}}); then introduce exactly those
identifications between objects of different types which are required
by extensionality: every type 0 object is identified with a type 1
object, and an easy meta-induction shows that every type *n*
object is identified with some type *n* + 1 object. The
resulting structure will satisfy all the axioms of Zermelo set theory
except Separation, and will satisfy all instances of Separation in
which each quantifier is bounded in a set (this boundedness comes in
because each instance of Comprehension in *TST* has each
quantifier bounded in a type, which becomes a bounding set for that
quantifier in the interpretation of Mac Lane set theory). It will
satisfy Infinity and Choice if the original model of *TST*
satisfies these axioms. The simplest map *f* is just the
identity on singletons of type 0 objects, which will have the effect
of identifying each type 0 object with its own singleton (a failure of
foundation). It can be arranged for the structure to satisfy
Foundation: for example, if Choice holds type 0 can be well-ordered
and each element of type 0 identified with the corresponding segment
in the well-ordering, so that type 0 becomes a von Neumann ordinal. (A
structure of this kind will never model Replacement, as there will be
a countable sequence of cardinals (the cardinalities of the types)
which is definable and cofinal below the cardinality of the universe.)
See Mathias (2001) for a full account.

Quine's set theory New Foundations (abbreviated *NF*), proposed
in 1937 in his paper “New foundations for mathematical logic”, is also
based on a procedure for identifying the objects in successive types
in order to obtain an untyped theory. However, in the case of
*NF* and related theories, the idea is to identify the entirety
of type *n* + 1 with type *n*; the type hierarchy is to
be collapsed completely. An obvious difficulty with this is that
Cantor's theorem suggests that type *n* + 1 (being the “power
set” of type *n*) should be intrinsically larger than type
*n* (and in some senses this is demonstrably true).

We first outline the reason that Quine believed that it might be
possible to collapse the type hierarchy. We recall from above: “We
admit sorts of object indexed by the natural numbers (this is purely a
typographical convenience; no actual reference to natural numbers is
involved). Type 0 is inhabited by ”individuals“ with no specified
structure. Type 1 is inhabited by sets of type 0 objects, and in
general type *n* + 1 is inhabited by sets of type *n*
objects.

The type system is enforced by the grammar of the language. Atomic
sentences are equations or membership statements, and they are only
well-formed if they take one of the forms *x*^{n} =
*y*^{n} or *x*^{n} ∈
*y*^{n+1}.

The axioms of extensionality of *TST* take the form

A^{n+1}=B^{n+1}↔ ∀x^{n}(x^{n}∈A^{n+1}↔x^{n}∈B^{n+1});

there is a separate axiom for each *n*.

The axioms of comprehension of *TST* take the form (for any
choice of a type *n*, a formula φ, and a variable
*A*^{n+1} not free in φ)

∃A^{n+1}∀x^{n}(x^{n}∈A^{n+1}↔ φ)

It is interesting to observe that the axioms of *TST* are
precisely analogous to those of naive set theory.”

For any formula φ, define φ^{+} as the formula
obtained by raising every type index on a variable in φ by
one. Quine observes that any proof of φ can be converted into a
proof of φ^{+} by raising all type indices in the original
proof. Further, every object {*x*^{n} |
φ}^{n+1} that the theory permits us to define has
a precise analogue {*x*^{n+1} |
φ^{+}}^{n+2} in the next higher type;
this can be iterated to produce “copies” of any defined object in each
higher type.

For example, the Frege definition of the natural numbers works in
*TST*. The number 3^{2} can be defined as the (type 2)
set of all (type 1) sets with three (type 0) elements. The number
3^{3} can be defined as the (type 3) set of all (type 2) sets
with three (type 1) elements. The number 3^{27} can be defined
as the (type 27) set of all (type 26) sets with three (type 25)
elements. And so forth. Our logic does not even permit us to say that
these are a sequence of distinct objects; we cannot ask the question
as to whether they are equal or not.

Quine suggested, in effect, that we tentatively suppose that φ
≡ φ^{+} for all φ ; it is not just the case that
if we can prove φ, we can prove φ^{+}, but that the
truth values of these sentences are the same. It then becomes strongly
tempting to identify {*x*^{n} |
φ}^{n+1} with {*x*^{n+1}
| φ^{+}}^{n+2}, since anything we can say
about these two objects is the same (and our new assumption implies
that we will assign the same truth values to corresponding assertions
about these two objects).

The theory *NF* which we obtain can be described briefly (but
deceptively) as being the first-order untyped theory with equality and
membership having the same axioms as *TST* but without the
distinctions of type. If this is not read very carefully, it may be
seen as implying that we have adopted the comprehension axioms of
naive set theory,

∃A∀x(x∈A↔ φ)

for each formula φ. But we have not. We have only adopted those
axioms for formulas φ which can be obtained from formulas of
*TST* by dropping distinctions of type between the variables
(without introducing any identifications between variables of different
types). For example, there is no way that *x* ∉ *x*
can be obtained by dropping distinctions of type from a formula of
*TST*, without identifying two variables of different type.
Formulas of the untyped language of set theory in which it is possible
to assign a type to each variable (the same type wherever it occurs) in
such a way as to get a formula of *TST* are said to be
*stratified*. The axioms of *NF* are strong
extensionality (no non-sets) and stratified comprehension.

Though the set {*x* | *x* ∉ *x*} is not
provided by stratified comprehension, some other sets which are not
found in any variant of Zermelo set theory are provided. For example,
*x* = *x* is a stratified formula, and the universal set
*V* = {*x* | *x* = *x*} is provided by an
instance of comprehension. Moreover, *V* ∈ *V* is
true.

All mathematical constructions which can be carried out in
*TST* can be carried out in *NF*. For example, the Frege
natural numbers can be constructed, and so can the set **N** of
Frege natural numbers. For example, the Frege natural number 1, the
set of *all* one-element sets, is provided by *NF*.

### 6.2 The consistency problem for *NF*; the known consistent subsystems

No contradictions are known to follow from *NF*, but some
uncomfortable consequences do follow. The Axiom of Choice is known to
fail in *NF*: Specker (1953) proved that the universe cannot be
well-ordered. (Since the universe cannot be well-ordered, it follows
that the “Axiom” of Infinity is a theorem of *NF*: if the
universe were finite, it could be well-ordered.) This might be thought
to be what one would expect on adopting such a dangerous comprehension
scheme, but this turns out not to be the problem. The problem is with
extensionality.

Jensen (1969) showed that *NFU*, the version of New Foundations
in which extensionality is weakened to allow many non-sets (as
described above under naive set theory) is consistent, is consistent
with Infinity and Choice, and is also consistent with the negation of
Infinity (which of course implies Choice). *NFU*, which has the
full stratified comprehension axiom of *NF* with all its
frighteningly big sets, is weaker in consistency strength than Peano
arithmetic; *NFU* + Infinity + Choice is of the same strength
as *TST* with Infinity and Choice or Mac Lane set theory.

Some other fragments of *NF*, obtained by weakening
comprehension rather than extensionality, are known to be consistent.
*NF _{3}*, the version of

*NF*in which one accepts only those instances of the axiom of comprehension which can be typed using three types, was shown to be consistent by Grishin (1969).

*NFP*, the version of *NF* in which one accepts
only instances of the axiom of comprehension which can be typed so as
to be instances of comprehension of predicative *TST*
(described above under type theories) was shown to be consistent by
Marcel Crabbé (1983). He also demonstrated the consistency of
the theory *NFI* in which one allows all instances of
stratified comprehension in which no variable appears of type higher
than that assigned to the set being defined (bound variables of the
same type as that of the set being defined are permitted, which allows
some impredicativity).

*NF _{3}*+Infinity has the same strength as
second-order arithmetic. So does

*NFI*(which has just enough impredicativity to define the natural numbers, and not enough for the Least Upper Bound Axiom).

*NFP*is equivalent to a weaker fragment of arithmetic, but does (unlike

*NFU*) prove Infinity: this is the only application of the Specker proof of ¬

*AC*to a provably consistent theory. Either Union is true (in which case we readily get all of

*NF*and Specker's proof of Infinity goes through) or Union is not true, in which case we note that all finite sets have unions, so there must be an infinite set.

*NF*has considerable interest for a surprising reason: it turns out that

_{3}*all*infinite models of

*TST*(simple type theory with three types) satisfy the ambiguity schema φ ≡ φ

_{3}^{+}(of course this only makes sense for formulas with one or two types) and this turns out to be enough to show that for any infinite model of

*TST*there is a model of

_{3}*NF*with the same theory.

_{3}*NF*is the same theory as

_{4}*NF*(Grishin 1969), and we have no idea how to get a model of

*TST*to satisfy ambiguity.

_{4}
Very recently, Sergei Tupailo (2010) has proved the consistency
of *NFSI*, the fragment of *NF* consisting of
extensionality and those instances of Comprehension ({*x*
∈ *A* | φ} exists) which are stratified and in which
the variable *x* is assigned the lowest type. Tupailo's proof
is highly technical, but Marcel Crabbe pointed out that a structure
for the language of set theory in which the sets are exactly the
finite and cofinite collections satisfies this theory (so it is very
weak). It should be noted that Tupailo's model of *NFSI*
satisfies additional propositions of interest not satisfied by the
very simple model of Crabbe, such as the existence of each Frege
natural number. It is of some interest whether this new fragment
represents an independent way of getting a consistent fragment
of *NF*. Note that *NFU*+*NFSI* is *NF*
because *NFSI* has strong extensionality.
Also, *NFP*+*NFSI* is *NF* because *NFSI*
includes Union. The relationship of *NFSI*
to *NF*_{3} is unclear, however. If Tupailo's theory is
not a fragment of Grishin's, it represents a fourth known method of
getting consistent fragments.

### 6.3 Mathematics in *NFU* + Infinity + Choice

Of these set theories, only *NFU* with Infinity, Choice and
possibly further strong axioms of infinity (of which more anon) is
really mathematically serviceable. We examine the construction of
models of this theory and the way mathematics works inside this
theory. A source for this development is (Holmes 1998). (Rosser's
(1973) develops the foundations of mathematics in *NF*: it can
adapted to *NFU* fairly easily).

A model of *NFU* can be constructed as follows. Well-known
results of model theory allow the construction of a nonstandard model
of *ZFC* (actually, a model of Mac Lane set theory suffices)
with an external automorphism *j* which moves a rank
*V*_{α}. We stipulate without loss of generality
that *j*(α) < α. The universe of our model of
*NFU* will be *V*_{α} and the emembership
relation will be defined as *x* ∈_{NFU} *y*
≡_{def}
*j*(*x*) ∈ *y* & *y* ∈
*V*_{j(α)+1} (where ∈ is the membership
relation of the nonstandard model). The proof that this is a model of
*NFU* is not long, but it is involved enough that we refer the
reader elsewhere. The basic idea is that the automorphism allows us
to code the (apparent) power set *V*_{α +1} of
our universe *V*_{α} into the “smaller”
*V*_{j(α)+1} which is included in our universe;
the left over objects in *V*_{α} −
*V*_{j(α)+1} become urelements. Note that
*V*_{α} − *V*_{j(α)+1} is
most of the domain of the model of *NFU* in a quite strong
sense: almost all of the universe is made up of urelements (note that
each *V*_{β +1} is the power set of
*V*_{β}, and so is strictly larger in size, and
not one but many stages intervene between *V*_{j(α
)+1} (the collection of “sets”) and *V*_{α}
(the “universe”)). This construction is related to the construction
used by Jensen, but is apparently first described explicitly in Boffa
(1988).

In any model of *NFU*, a structure which looks just like one of
these models can be constructed in the isomorphism classes of
well-founded extensional relations. The theory of isomorphism classes
of well-founded extensional relations with a top element looks like
the theory of (an initial segment of) the usual cumulative hierarchy,
because every set in Zermelo-style set theory is uniquely determined
by the isomorphism type of the restriction of the membership relation
to its transitive closure. The surprise is that we not only see a
structure which looks like an initial segment of the cumulative
hierarchy: we also see an external endomorphism of this structure
which moves a rank (and therefore cannot be a set), in terms of which
we can replicate the model construction above and get an
interpretation of *NFU* of this kind inside *NFU*! The
endomorphism is induced by the map *T* which sends the
isomorphism type of a relation *R* to the isomorphism type of
*R*^{ι} = { <{*x*}, {*y*}> |
*xRy*}. There is no reason to
believe that *T* is a function: it sends any relation
*R* to a relation *R*^{ι} which is one type
higher in terms of *TST*. It is demonstrable that *T* on
the isomorphism types of well-founded extensional relations is not a
set function (we will not show this here, but our discussion of the
Burali-Forti paradox below should give a good idea of the reasons for
this). See Holmes (1998) for the full discussion.

This suggests that the underlying world view of *NFU*, in spite
of the presence of the universal set, Frege natural numbers, and other
large objects, may not be that different from the world view of
Zermelo-style set theory; we build models of *NFU* in a certain
way in Zermelo-style set theory, and *NFU* itself reflects this
kind of construction internally. A further, surprising result is that
in models of *NFU* constructed from a nonstandard
*V*_{α} with automorphism as above, the
membership relation on the nonstandard *V*_{α} is
first-order definable (in a very elaborate way) in terms of the
relation ∈_{NFU}; this is very surprising, since it seems
superficially as if all information about the extensions of the
urelements has been discarded in this construction. But this turns out
not to be the case (and this means that the urelements, which seem to
have no internal information, nonetheless have a great deal of
structure in these models).

Models of *NFU* can have a “finite” (but externally infinite)
universe if the ordinal α in the construction is a nonstandard
natural number. If α is infinite, the model of *NFU* will
satisfy Infinity. If the Axiom of Choice holds in the model of
Zermelo-style set theory, it will hold in the model of
*NFU*.

Now we look at the mathematical universe according to *NFU*,
rather than looking at models of *NFU* from the outside.

The Frege construction of the natural numbers works perfectly in
*NFU*. If Infinity holds, there will be no last natural number
and we can define the usual set **N** of natural numbers just as
we did above.

Any of the usual ordered pair constructions works in *NFU*. The
usual Kuratowski pair is inconvenient in *NF* or in
*NFU*, because the pair is two types higher than its
projections in terms of *TST*. This means that functions and
relations are three types higher than the elements of their domains
and ranges. There is a type-level pair defined by Quine (1945)
(type-level because it is the same type as its projections) which is
definable in *NF* and also on *V*_{α} for
any infinite ordinal α; this pair can be defined and used in
*NF* and the fact that it is definable on infinite
*V*_{α} means that it can be assumed in
*NFU*+Infinity that there is a type-level ordered pair (the
existence of such a pair also follows from Infinity and Choice
together). This would make the type displacement between functions and
relations and elements of their domains and ranges just one, the same
as the displacement between the types of sets and their elements. We
will assume that ordered pairs are of the same type as their
projections in the sequel, but we will not present the rather
complicated definition of the Quine pair.

Once pairs are defined, the definition of relations and functions
proceeds exactly as in the usual set theory. The definitions of
integers and rational numbers present no problem, and the Dedekind
construction of the reals can be carried out as usual. We will focus
here on developing the solutions to the paradoxes of Cantor and
Burali-Forti in *NFU*, which give a good picture of the odd
character of this set theory, and also set things up nicely for a
brief discussion of natural strong axioms of infinity for
*NFU*. It is important to realize as we read the ways in which
*NFU* evades the paradoxes that this evasion is successful:
*NFU* is known to be consistent if the usual set theory is
consistent, and close examination of the models of *NFU* shows
exactly why these apparent dodges work.

Two sets are said to be of the same cardinality just in case there is
a bijection between them. This is standard. But we then proceed to
define |*A*| (the cardinality of a set *A*) as the set
of all sets which are the same size as *A*, realizing the
definition intended by Frege and Russell, and apparently intended by
Cantor as well. Notice that |*A*| is one type higher than
*A*. The Frege natural numbers are the same objects as the
finite cardinal numbers.

The Cantor theorem of the usual set theory asserts that |*A*|
< |℘(*A*)|. This is clearly not true in
*NFU*, since | *V*| is the cardinality of the universe
and |℘(*V*)| is the cardinality of the set of
sets, and in fact |*V*| >>
|℘(*V*)| in all known models of *NFU*
(there are many intervening cardinals in all such models). But
|*A*| < |℘(*A*)| does not make sense
in *TST*: it is ill-typed. The correct theorem in *TST*,
which is inherited by *NFU*, is
|℘_{1}(*A*)| <
|℘(*A*)|, where
℘_{1}(*A*) is the set of one-element
subsets of *A*, which is at the same type as the power set of
*A*. So we have |℘_{1}(*V*)|
< |℘(*V*)|: there are more sets than there
are singleton sets. The apparent bijection *x*
{*x*} between ℘
_{1}(*V*) and *V* cannot be a set (and there is
no reason to expect it to be a set, since it has an unstratified
definition).

A set which satisfies |*A*| =
|℘_{1}(*A*)| is called a
*cantorian* set, since it satisfies the usual form of Cantor's
theorem. A set *A* which satisfies the stronger condition that
the restriction of the singleton map to *A* is a set is said to
be *strongly cantorian (s.c.)*. Strongly cantorian sets are
important because it is not necessary to assign a relative type to a
variable known to be restricted to a strongly cantorian set, as it is
possible to use the restriction of the singleton map and its inverse
to freely adjust the type of any such variable for purposes of
stratification. The strongly cantorian sets are can be thought of as
analogues of the *small* sets of the usual set theory.

Ordinal numbers are defined as equivalence classes of well-orderings
under similarity. There is a natural order on ordinal numbers, and in
*NFU* as in the usual set theory it turns out to be a
well-ordering — and, as in naive set theory, a set! Since the natural
order on the ordinal numbers is a set, it has an order type Ω
which is itself one of the ordinal numbers. Now in the usual set
theory we prove that the order type of the restriction of the natural
order on the ordinals to the ordinals less than α is the ordinal
α itself; however, this is an ill-typed statement in
*TST*, where, assuming a type level ordered pair, the second
occurrence of α is two types higher than the first (it would be
four types higher if the Kuratowski ordered pair were used). Since the
ordinals are isomorphism types of relations, we can define the
operation *T* on them as above. “The order type of the
restriction of the natural order on the ordinals to the ordinals less
than α is the ordinal *T*^{2}(α)” is an
assertion which makes sense in *TST* and is in fact true in
*TST* and so in *NFU*. We thus find that the order type
of the restriction of the natural order on the ordinals to the
ordinals less than Ω is *T*^{2}(Ω), whence
we find that *T*^{2}(Ω) (as the order type of a
proper initial segment of the ordinals) is strictly less than Ω
(which is the order type of *all* the ordinals). Once again,
the fact that the singleton map is not a function eliminates the
“intuitively obvious” similarity between these orders. This also shows
that *T* is not a function. *T* is an order endomorphism
of the ordinals, though, whence we have Ω >
*T*^{2}(Ω) > *T*^{4}(Ω
)…, which may be vaguely disturbing, though this “sequence” is
not a set. A perhaps useful comment is that in the models of
*NFU* described above, the action of *T* on ordinals
exactly parallels the action of *j* on order types of
well-orderings (*j* does not send *NFU* ordinals to
ordinals, exactly, so this needs to be phrased carefully): the
“descending sequence” already has an analogue in the sequence α
> *j*(α) > *j*^{2}(α
)… in the original nonstandard model. Some have asserted that
this phenomenon (that the ordinals in any model of *NFU* are
not externally well-ordered) can be phrased as “*NFU* has no
standard model”. We reserve judgement on this — we do note that the
theorem “the ordinals in any (set!) model of *NFU* are not
well-ordered” is a theorem of *NFU* itself; note that
*NFU* does not see the universe as a model of *NFU*
(even though it is a set) because the membership relation is not a set
relation (if it were, the singleton map certainly would be).

*NFU* + Infinity + Choice is a relatively weak theory: like
Zermelo set theory it does not prove even that
ℵ_{ω}
exists. As is the case with Zermelo set theory, natural extensions of
this theory make it much stronger. We give just one example. The Axiom
of Cantorian Sets is the deceptively simple statement (to which there
are no evident counterexamples) that “every cantorian set is strongly
cantorian”. *NFU* + Infinity + Choice + Cantorian Sets is a
considerably stronger theory than *NFU* + Infinity + Choice: in
its theory of isomorphism types of well-founded extensional relations
with top element, the cantorian types with the obvious “membership”
relation satisfy the axioms of *ZFC* + “there is an
*n*-Mahlo cardinal” for each concrete *n*. There is no
mathematical need for the devious interpretation: this theory proves
the existence of *n*-Mahlo cardinals and supports all
mathematical constructions at that level of consistency strength in
its own terms without any need to refer to the theory of well-founded
extensional relations. More elaborate statements about such properties
as “cantorian” and “strongly cantorian” (applied to order types as
well as cardinality) yield even stronger axioms of infinity.

Our basic claim about *NFU* + Infinity + Choice (and its
extensions) is that it is a mathematically serviceable alternative set
theory with its own intrinsic motivation (although we have used
Zermelo style set theory to prove its consistency here, the entire
development can be carried out in terms of *TST* alone: one can
use *TST* as meta-theory, show in *TST* that consistency
of *TST* implies consistency of *NFU*, and use this
result to amend one's meta-theory to *NFU*, thus abandoning the
distinctions between types). We do not claim that it is better than
*ZFC*, but we do claim that it is adequate, and that it is
important to know that adequate alternatives exist; we do claim that
it is useful to know that there are different ways to found
mathematics, as we have encountered the absurd assertion that
“mathematics is whatever is formalized in *ZFC*”.

### 6.4 Critique of *NFU*

Like Zermelo set theory, *NFU* has advantages and disadvantages.
An advantage, which corresponds to one of the few clear disadvantages
of Zermelo set theory, is that it is possible to define natural
numbers, cardinal numbers, and ordinal numbers in the natural way
intended by Frege, Russell, and Whitehead.

Many but not all of the purported disadvantages of *NFU* as a
working foundation for mathematics reduce to complaints by
mathematicians used to working in *ZFC* that “this is not what
we are used to”. The fact that there are fewer singletons than objects
(in spite of an obvious external one to one correspondence) takes
getting used to. In otherwise familiar constructions, one sometimes
has to make technical use of the singleton map or *T*
operations to adjust types to get stratification. This author can
testify that it is perfectly possible to develop good intuition for
*NFU* and work effectively with stratified comprehension; part
of this but not all of it is a good familiarity with how things are
done in *TST*, as one also has to develop a feel for how to use
principles that subvert stratification.

As Sol Feferman has pointed out, one place where the treatments in
*NFU* (at least those given so far) are clearly quite involved
are situations in which one needs to work with indexed families of
objects. The proof of König's Lemma of set theory in Holmes
(1998) is a good example of how complicated this kind of thing can get
in *NFU*. We have a notion that the use of sets of “Quine
atoms” (self-singletons) as index sets (necessarily for s.c. sets)
might relieve this difficulty, but we haven't proved this in practice,
and problems would remain for the noncantorian situation.

The fact that “*NFU* has no standard models” (the ordinals are
not well-ordered in any set model of *NFU*) is a criticism of
*NFU* which has merit. We observe, though, that there are other
set theories in which nonstandard objects are deliberately provided
(we will review some of these below), and some of the applications of
those set theories to “nonstandard analysis” might be duplicated in
suitable versions of *NFU*. We also observe that strong
principles which minimize the nonstandard behavior of the ordinals
turn out to give surprisingly strong axioms of infinity in
*NFU*; the nonstandard structure of the ordinals allows insight
into phenomena associated with large cardinals.

Some have thought that the fact that *NFU* combines a universal
set and other big structures with mathematical fluency in treating
these structures might make it a suitable medium for category theory.
Although we have some inclination to be partial to this class of set
theories, we note that there are strong counterarguments to this view.
It is true that there are big categories, such as the category of all
sets (as objects) and functions (as the morphisms between them), the
category of all topological spaces and homeomorphism, and even the
category of all categories and functors. However, the category of all
sets and functions, for example, while it is a set, is not “cartesian
closed” (a technical property which this category is expected to
have): see McLarty (1992). Moreover, if one restricts to the
s.c. sets and functions, one obtains a cartesian closed category,
which is much more closely analogous to the category of all sets and
functions over *ZFC* — and shares with it the
disadvantage of being a proper class! Contemplation of the models only
confirms the impression that the correct analogue of the proper class
category of sets and functions in *ZFC* is the proper class
category of s.c. sets and functions in *NFU*! There may be some
applications for the big set categories in *NFU*, but they are
not likely to prove to be as useful as some have optimistically
suggested. See Feferman (2006) for an extensive discussion.

An important point is that there is a relativity of viewpoint here:
the *NFU* world can be understood to be a nonstandard initial
segment of the world of *ZFC* (which could be arranged to
include its entire standard part!) with an automorphism and the
*ZFC* world (or an initial segment of it) can be interpreted in
*NFU* as the theory of isomorphism classes of well-founded
extensional relations with top (often restricted to its strongly
cantorian part); these two theories are mutually interpretable, so the
corresponding views of the world admit mutual
translation.

*ZFC* might be viewed as motivated by a generalization of the
theory of sets in extension (as generalizations of the notion of
finite set, replacing the finite with the transfinite and the rejected
infinite with the rejected Absolute Infinite of Cantor) while the
motivation of *NFU* can be seen as a correction of the theory
of sets as intensions (that is, as determined by predicates) which led
to the disaster of naive set theory. Nino Cocchiarella (1985) has noted
that Frege's theory of concepts could be saved if one could motivate a
restriction to stratified concepts (the abandonment of strong
extensionality is merely a return to common sense). But the impression
of a fundamental contrast should be tempered by the observation that
the two theories nonetheless seem to be looking at the same universe in
different ways!

## 7. Positive set theories

### 7.1 Topological motivation of positive set theory

We will not attempt an exhaustive survey of positive set theory; our
aim here is to motivate and exhibit the axioms of the strongest system
of this kind familiar to us, which is the third of the systems of
classical set theory which we regard as genuinely mathematically
serviceable (the other two being *ZFC* and suitable strong
extensions of *NFU* + Infinity + Choice).

A *positive formula* is a formula which belongs to the smallest
class of formulas containing a false statement ⊥, all atomic
membership and equality formulas and closed under the formation of
conjunctions, disjunctions, universal and existential
quantifications. A *generalized positive formula* is obtained
if we allow *bounded* universal and existential quantifications
(the additional strength comes from allowing (∀*x*
∈ *A* | φ) ≡ ∀*x*(*x*
∈ *A* → φ); bounded existential
quantification is positive in any case).

Positive comprehension is motivated superficially by an attack on one
of the elements of Russell's paradox (the negation): a positive set
theory will be expected to support the axiom of extensionality (as
usual) and the axiom of *(generalized) positive comprehension*:
for any (generalized) positive formula φ, {*x* | φ}
exists.

We mention that we are aware that positive comprehension with the
additional generalization of positive formulas allowing one to include
set abstracts {*x* | φ} (with φ generalized positive)
in generalized positive formulas is consistent, but turns out not to
be consistent with extensionality. We are not very familiar with this
theory, so have no additional comments to make about it; do notice
that the translations of formulas with set abstracts in them into
first order logic without abstracts are definitely not positive in our
more restricted sense, and so one may expect some kind of trouble!

The motivation for the kinds of positive set theory we are familiar
with is *topological*. We are to understand the sets as closed
sets under some topology. Finite unions and intersections of closed
sets are closed; this supports the inclusion of {*x* | φ
∨ ψ} and {*x* | φ & ψ} as sets if {*x*
| φ} and {*x* | ψ} are sets. Arbitrary intersections
of closed sets are closed: this supports our adoption of even bounded
universal quantification (if each {*x* | φ(*y*)} is
a set, then {*x* | ∀*y*φ(*y*)} is
the intersection of all of these sets, and so should be closed, and
{*x* ∈ *A* |
∀*y*φ(*y*)} is also an intersection of
closed sets and so should be closed. The motivation for permitting
{*x* | ∃*y*φ(*y*)} when each
{*x* | φ(*y*)} exists is more subtle, since
infinite unions do not as a rule preserve closedness: the idea is that
the set of pairs (*x*, *y*) such that φ(*x*,
*y*) is closed, and the topology is such that the projection of
a closed set is closed. Compactness of the topology
suffices. Moreover, we now need to be aware that formulas with several
parameters need to be considered in terms of a product topology.

An additional very powerful principle should be expected to hold in a
topological model: for any class *C* whatsoever (any collection
of sets), the intersection of all sets which include *C* as a
subclass should be a set. Every class has a set closure.

We attempt the construction of a model of such a topological
theory. To bring out an analogy with Mac Lane set theory and
*NF*, we initially present a model built by collapsing
*TST* in yet another manner.

The model of *TST* that we use contains one type 0 object
*u*. Note that this means that each type is finite. Objects of
each type are construed as better and better approximations to the
untyped objects of the final set theory. *u* approximates any
set. The type *n* + 1 approximant to any set *A* is
intended to be the set of type *n* approximants of the elements
of *A*.

This means that we should be able to specify when a type *n* +
2 set *A*^{n+2} refines a type *n* + 1 set
*A*^{n+1}: each (type *n* + 1) element of
*A*^{n+2} should refine a (type *n*) element of
*A*^{n+1}, and each element of *A*^{n+1}
should be refined by one or more elements of *A*^{n+2}.
Along with the information that the type 0 object *u* refines
both of the elements of type 1, this gives a complete recursive
definition of the notion of refinement of a type *n* set by a
type *n* + 1 set. Each type *n* + 1 set refines a unique
type *n* set but may be refined by many type *n* + 2
sets. (The “hereditarily finite” sets without *u* in their
transitive closure are refined by just one precisely analogous set at
the next higher level). Define a general relation *x* ∼
*y* on all elements of the model of set theory as holding when
*x* = *y* (if they are of the same type) or if there is
a chain of refinements leading from the one of *x*, *y*
of lower type to the one of higher type.

The objects of our first model of positive set theory are sequences
*s*_{n} with each
*s*_{n} a type *n* set and with
*s*_{n+1} refining
*s*_{n} for each *n*. We say that
*s* ∈ *t* when *s*_{n}
∈ *t*_{n+1} for all *n*. It is
straightforward to establish that if *s*_{n}
∈ *t*_{n+1} or
*s*_{n} = *t*_{n} is
false, then *s*_{k} ∈ *t*_{k+1} or
(respectively) *s*_{k} = *t*_{k} is
false for all *k* > *n*. More generally, if
*s*_{m} ∼ *t*_{n} is false,
then *s*_{m+k} ∼ *t*_{n+k}
is false for all *k* ≥ 0.

Formulas in the language of the typed theory with ∈ and ∼ have a monotonicity property: if φ is a generalized positive formula and one of its typed versions is false, then any version of the same formula obtained by raising types and refining the values of free variables in the formula will continue to be false. It is not hard to see why this will fail to work if negation is allowed.

It is also not too hard to show that if all typed versions of a
generalized positive formula φ in the language of the intended
model (with sequences *s* appearing as values of free variables
replaced by their values at the appropriate types) are true, then the
original formula φ is true in the intended model. The one
difficulty comes in with existential quantification: the fact that one
has a witness to (∃*x*.φ(*x*)) in each typed
version does not immediately give a sequence witnessing this in the
intended model. The tree property of ω helps here: only finitely
many approximants to sets exist at each level, so one can at each
level choose an approximant refinements of which are used at
infinitely many higher levels as witnesses to (∃
*x*.φ(*x*)), then restrict attention to refinements
of that approximant; in this way one gets not an arbitrary sequence of
witnesses at various types but a “convergent” sequence (an element of
the intended model).

One then shows that any generalized positive formula φ(*x*)
has an extension {*x* | φ(*x*)} by considering the
sets of witnesses to φ(*x*) in each type *n*; these
sets themselves can be used to construct a convergent sequence (with
the proviso that some apparent elements found at any given stage may
need to be discarded; one defines *s*_{n+1} as
the set of those type *n* approximants which not only witness
φ(*x*) at the current type *n* but have refinements
which witness φ(*x*) at each subsequent type. The sequence
of sets *s* obtained will be an element of the intended model
and have the intended extension.

Finally, for any class of sequences (elements of the intended model)
*C*, there is a smallest *set* which contains all
elements of *C*: let *c*_{n+1} be the set of
terms *s*_{n} of sequences *s* belonging to
*C* at each type *n* to construct a sequence *c*
which will have the desired property.

This theory can be made stronger by indicating how to pass to
transfinite typed approximations. The type α + 1 approximation
to a set will always be the set of type α approximations; if
λ is a limit ordinal, the type λ approximation will be
the sequence {*s*_{β}
}_{β < λ} of
approximants to the set at earlier levels (so our “intended model”
above is the set of type ω approximations in a larger model).

Everything above will work at any limit stage except the treatment of
the existential quantifier. The existential quantifier argument will
work if the ordinal stage at which the model is being constructed is a
weakly compact cardinal. This is a moderately strong large cardinal
property (for an uncountable cardinal): it implies, for example, the
existence of proper classes of inaccessibles and of *n*-Mahlo
cardinals for each *n*.

So for each weakly compact cardinal κ (including κ = ω) the approximants of level κ in the transfinite type theory just outlined make up a model of set theory with extensionality, generalized positive comprehension, and the closure property. We will refer to this model as the “κ-hyperuniverse”.

### 7.2 The system *GPK*^{+}_{∞} of Olivier Esser

^{+}

_{∞}

We now present an axiomatic theory which has the
κ-hyperuniverses with κ > ω as (some of its)
models. This is a first-order theory with equality and membership as
primitive relations. This system is called *GPK
^{+}_{∞}* and is described in
Esser (1999).

Extensionality:Sets with the same elements are the same.

Generalized Positive Comprehension:For any generalized positive formula φ, {x| φ} exists. (Notice that since we view the false formula ⊥ as positive we need no special axiom asserting the existence of the empty set).

Closure:For any formula φ(x), there is a setCsuch thatx∈C≡ [∀y∀z(φ(z) →z∈y) →x∈y];Cis the intersection of all sets which include all objects which satisfy φ :Cis called the closure of the class {x| φ(x)}.

Infinity:The closure of the von Neumann ordinals is not an element of itself. (This excludes the ω-hyperuniverse, in which the closure of the class of von Neumann ordinals has itself as an additional member).

As one might expect, some of the basic concepts of this set theory are topological (sets being the closed classes of the topology on the universe).

This set theory interprets *ZF*. This is shown by demonstrating
first that the discrete sets (and more particularly the (closed) sets
of isolated points in the topology) satisfy an analogue of Replacement
(a definable function (defined by a formula which need not be
positive) with a discrete domain is a set), and so an analogue of
separation, then by showing that well-founded sets are isolated in the
topology and the class of well-founded sets is closed under the
constructions of *ZF*.

Not only *ZF* but also Kelley-Morse class theory can be
interpreted; any definable class of well-founded sets has a closure
whose well-founded members will be exactly the desired members (it
will as a rule have other, non-well-founded members). Quantification
over these “classes” defines sets just as easily as quantification
over mere sets in this context; so we get an impredicative class
theory. Further, one can prove internally to this theory that the
“proper class ordinal” in the interpreted *KM* has the tree
property, and so is in effect a weakly compact cardinal; this shows
that this theory has considerable consistency strength (for example,
its version of *ZF* proves that there is a proper class of
inaccessible cardinals, a proper class of *n*-Mahlos for each
*n*, and so forth): the use of large cardinals in the outlined
model construction above was essential.

The Axiom of Choice in any global form is inconsistent with this theory, but it is consistent for all well-founded sets to be well-orderable (in fact, this will be true in the models described above if the construction is carried out in an environment in which Choice is true). This is sufficient for the usual mathematical applications.

Since *ZF* is entirely immersed in this theory, it is clearly
serviceable for the usual classical applications. The Frege natural
numbers are not definable in this theory (except for 0 and 1); it is
better to work with the finite ordinals. The ability to prove strong
results about large cardinals using the properties of the proper class
ordinal suggests that the superstructure of large sets can be used for
mathematical purposes as well. Familiarity with techniques of topology
of κ-compact spaces would be useful for understanding what can
be done with the big sets in this theory.

With the negation of the Axiom of Infinity, we get the theory of the ω-hyperuniverse, which is equiconsistent with second-order arithmetic, and so actually has a fair amount of mathematical strength. In this theory, the class of natural numbers (considered as finite ordinals) is not closed and acquires an extra element “at infinity” (which happens to be the closure of the class of natural numbers itself). Individual real numbers can be coded (using the usual Dedekind construction, actually) but the theory of sets of real numbers will begin to look quite different.

### 7.3 Critique of positive set theory

One obvious criticism is that this theory is *extremely* strong,
compared with the other systems given here. This could be a good thing
or a bad thing, depending on one's attitude. If one is worried about
the consistency of a weakly compact, the level of consistency strength
here is certainly a problem (though the theory of the ω
-hyperuniverse will stay around in any case). On the other hand, the
fact that the topological motivation for set theory seems to work and
yields a higher level of consistency strength than one might expect
(“weakly compact” infinity following from merely uncountable
infinity) might be taken as evidence that these are very powerful
ideas.

The mathematical constructions that are readily accessible to this
author are simply carried over from *ZF* or *ZFC*; the
well-founded sets are considered within the world of positive set
theory, and we find that they have exactly the properties we expect
them to have from the usual viewpoint. It is rather nice that we get
(fuzzier) objects in our set theory suitable to represent all of the
usual proper classes; it is less clear what we can do with the other
large objects than it is in *NFU*. A topologist might find this
system quite interesting; in any event, topological expertise seems
required to evaluate what can be done with the extra machinery in this
system.

We briefly review the paradoxes: the Russell paradox doesn't work
because *x* ∉ *x* is not a positive formula;
notice that {*x* | *x* ∈ *x*} exists! The
Cantor paradox does not work because the proof of the Cantor theorem
relies on an instance of comprehension which is not
positive. ℘(*V*) does exist and is equal to
*V*. The ordinals are defined by a non-positive condition, and
do not make up a set, but it is interesting to note that the closure
**CL**(*On*) of the class *On* of ordinals
is equal to *On* ∪ {**CL**(*On*)}; the
closure has itself as its only unexpected element.

## 8. Logically motivated variations

In the preceding set theories, the properties of the usual objects of
mathematics accord closely with their properties as “intuitively”
understood by most mathematicians (or lay people). (Strictly speaking,
this is not quite true in *NFU* + Infinity without the
additional assumption of Rosser's Axiom of Counting, but the latter
axiom (“**N** is strongly cantorian”) is almost always assumed
in practice).

In the two classes of system discussed in this section, logical considerations lead to the construction of theories in which “familiar” parts of the world look quite different. Constructive mathematicians do not see the same continuum that we do, and if they are willing to venture into the higher reaches of set theory, they find a different world there, too. The proponents of nonstandard analysis also find it useful to look at a different continuum (and even different natural numbers) though they do see the usual continuum and natural numbers embedded therein.

### 8.1 Constructive set theory

There are a number of attempts at constructive (intuitionistic) theories of types and set theories. We will describe a few systems here, quite briefly as we are not expert in constructive mathematics.

An intuitionistic typed theory of sets is readily obtained by simply
adopting the intuitionistic versions of the axioms of *TST* as
axioms. An Axiom of Infinity would be wanted to ensure that an
interpretation of Heyting arithmetic could be embedded in the theory;
it might be simplest to provide type 0 with the primitives of
*HA* (just as the earliest versions of *TST* had the
primitives of classical arithmetic provided for type 0). We believe
that this would give a quite comfortable environment for doing
constructive mathematics.

Daniel Dzierzgowski has gone so far as to study an intuitionistic
version of *NF* constructed in the same way; all that we can
usefully report here is that it is not clear that the resulting theory
*INF* is as strong as *NF* (in particular, it is unclear
whether *INF* interprets Heyting Arithmetic, because Specker's
proof of Infinity in *NF* does not seem to go through in any
useful way) but the consistency problem for *INF* remains open
in spite of the apparent weakness of the theory.

A more ambitious theory is *IZF* (intuitionistic
*ZF*). An interesting feature of the development of
*IZF* is that one must be very careful in one's choice of
axioms: the usual classical forms of the axioms allow a constructive
proof of the Law of Excluded Middle, and so simply reduce to classical
*ZF*.

A set of axioms which seems to yield a nontrivial system of constructive mathematics is the following:

Extensionality:in the usualZFform.

Pairing, Union, Power Set, Infinity:in the usualZFform.

Collection:We are not sure why this is often preferred in constructive set theory, as it seems to us less constructive than replacement? But we have heard it said that Replacement is constructively quite weak.

∈-Induction:The induction on membership form is preferred for a highly practical reason: more usual formulations of Foundation immediately imply the Axiom of Excluded Middle!

See Friedman (1973) and other internet resources for further information
about *IZF*.

As is often the case in constructive mathematics, very simple notions
of classical mathematics (such as the notion of an ordinal) become
much more complicated in the constructive environment. Being inexpert,
we will not involve ourselves further in this. It is worth noting that
*IZF*, like many but not all constructive systems, admits a
double negation interpretation of the corresponding classical theory
*ZF*; we might think of *IZF* as a weakened version of
*ZF* from the classical standpoint, but in its own terms it is
the theory of a larger, more complex realm in which a copy of the
classical universe of set theory is embedded.

The theories I have described so far are criticized by some
constructive mathematicians for allowing an unrestricted power set
operation. A weaker system *CZF* has been proposed which does
not have this operation (and which has the same level of strength as
the weak set theory *KPU* without Power Set described
earlier).

*CZF* omits Power Set. It replaces Foundation with
∈-Induction for the same reasons as above. The axioms of
Extensionality, Pairing, and Union are as in ordinary set theory. The
axiom of Separation is restricted to bounded (Δ_{0})
formulas as in Mac Lane set theory or *KPU*.

The Collection axiom is replaced by two weaker axioms.

The Strong Collection axiom scheme asserts that if for every
*x* ∈ *A* there is *y* such that φ
(*x*, *y*), then there is a set *B* such that for
every *x* ∈ *A* there is *y* ∈
*B* such that φ(*x*, *y*) (as in the usual
scheme) but also for every *y* ∈ *B* there is
*x* ∈ *A* such that φ(*x*, *y*)
(*B* doesn't contain any redundant elements). The additional
restriction is useful because of the weaker form of the Separation
Axiom.

The Subset Collection scheme can be regarded as containing a very weak
form of Power Set. It asserts, for each formula φ(*x*,
*y*, *z*) that for every *A* and *B*,
there is a set *C* such that for each *z* such that
∀*x* ∈ *A*∃*y* ∈
*B*[φ(*x*, *y*, *z*)] there is
*R*_{z} ∈ *C* such that for every
*x* ∈ *A* there is *y* ∈
*R*_{z} such that φ(*x*, *y*,
*z*) *and* for every *y* ∈
*R*_{z} there is *x* ∈ *A* such that
φ(*x*, *y*, *z*) (this is the same
restriction as in the Strong Collection axiom; notice that not only
are images under the relation constructed, but the images are further
collected into a set).

The Subset Collection scheme is powerful enough to allow the
construction of the set of all functions from a set *A* to a
set *B* as a set (which suggests that the classical version of
this theory is as strong as *ZF*, since the existence of the
set of functions from *A* to {0, 1} is classically as strong as
the existence of the power set of *A*, and strong collection
should allow the proof of strong separation in a classical
environment).

This theory is known to be at the same level of consistency strength
as the classical set theory *KPU*. It admits an interpretation
in Martin-Löf constructive type theory (as *IZF* does
not).

See (Aczel 1978, 1982, 1986) for further information about this theory.

### 8.2 Set Theory for Nonstandard Analysis

Nonstandard analysis originated with Abraham Robinson (1966), who noticed that the use of nonstandard models of the continuum would allow one to make sense of the infinitesimal numbers of Leibniz, and so obtain an elegant formulation of the calculus with fewer alternations of quantifiers.

Later exponents of nonstandard analysis observed that the constant reference to the model theory made the exposition less elementary than it could be; they had the idea of working in a set theory which was inherently “nonstandard”.

We present a system of this kind, a version of the set theory
*IST* of Nelson (1977). The primitives of the theory are
equality, membership, and a primitive notion of
*standardness*. The axioms follow.

Extensionality, Pairing, Union, Power Set, Foundation, Choice:As in our presentation ofZFCabove.

Separation, Replacement:As in our presentation ofZFCabove, except that the standardness predicate cannot appear in the formula φ.

Definition:For any formula φ, the formula φ^{st}is obtained by replacing each quantifier over the universe with a quantifier over all standard objects (and each quantifier bounded in a set with a quantifier restricted to the standard elements of that set).

Idealization:There is a finite set which contains all standard sets.

Transfer:For each formula φ(x) not mentioning the standardness predicate and containing no parameters (free variables other thanx) except standard sets, ∀xφ(x) ≡ ∀x(standard(x) → φ(x)).

Standardization:For any formula φ (x) and standard setA, there is a standard setBwhose standard elements are exactly the standard elementsxofAsatisfying φ(x).

Our form of Idealization is simpler than the usual version but has the same effect.

Transfer immediately implies that any uniquely definable object (defined without reference to standardness) is in fact a standard object. So the empty set is standard, ω is standard, and so forth. But it is not the case that all elements of standard objects are standard. For consider the cardinality of a finite set containing all standard objects; this is clearly greater that any standard natural number (usual element of ω) yet it is equally clearly an element of ω. It turns out to be provable that every set all of whose elements are standard is a standard finite set.

Relative consistency of this theory with the usual set theory
*ZFC* is established via familiar results of model
theory. Working in this theory makes it possible to use the techniques
of nonstandard analysis in a “elementary” way, without ever appealing
explicitly to the properties of nonstandard models.

## 9. Small set theories

It is commonly noted that set theory produces far more superstructure than is needed to support classical mathematics. In this section, we describe two miniature theories which purport to provide enough foundations without nearly as much superstructure. Our “pocket set theory” (motivated by a suggestion of Rudy Rucker) is just small; Vopenka's alternative set theory is also “nonstandard” in its approach.

### 9.1 Pocket set theory

This theory is a proposal of ours, which elaborates on a suggestion of
Rudy Rucker. We (and many others) have observed that of all the orders
of infinity in Cantor's paradise, only two actually occur in classical
mathematical practice outside set theory: these are
ℵ_{0}
and *c*, the infinity of the natural numbers and the infinity
of the continuum. Pocket set theory is a theory motivated by the idea
that these are the only infinities (Vopenka's alternative set theory
also has this property, by the way).

The objects of pocket set theory are classes. A class is said to be a
set iff it is an element (as in the usual class theories over
*ZFC*).

The ordered pair is defined using the usual Kuratowski definition, but without assuming that there are any ordered pairs. The notions of relation, function, bijection and equinumerousness are defined as usual (still without any assumptions as to the existence of any ordered pairs). An infinite set is defined as a set which is equinumerous with one of its proper subsets. A proper class is defined as a class which is not a set.

The axioms of pocket set theory are

Extensionality:Classes with the same elements are equal.

Class Comprehension:For any formula φ, there is a class {x| φ(x)} which contains all setsxsuch that φ(x). (note that this is the class comprehension axiom of Kelley-Morse set theory, without any restrictions on quantifiers in φ).

Infinite Sets:There is an infinite set; all infinite sets are the same size.

Proper Classes:All proper classes are the same size, and any class the same size as a proper class is proper.

We cannot resist proving the main results (because the proofs are funny).

Empty Set:If the empty set were a proper class, then all proper classes would be empty. In particular, the Russell class would be empty. LetIbe an infinite set. {I} would be a set, because it is not empty, and {I,{I}} would be a set (again because it is not empty). But {I,{I}} belongs to the Russell class (as a set with two elements, it cannot be either the Dedekind infiniteIor the singleton {I}. So ∅ is a set.

Singleton:If any singleton {x} is a proper class, then all singletons are proper classes, and the Russell class is a singleton. {I, ∅} is a set (both elements are sets, and the class is not a singleton) which cannot be a member of itself, and so is in the Russell class. But so is ∅ in the Russell class; so the Russell class is not a singleton, and all singletons are sets.

Unordered Pair:The Russell class is not a pair, because it has distinct elements ∅, {∅}, {{∅}}.

Relations:All Kuratowski ordered pairs exist, so all definable relations are realized as set relations.

Cantor's theorem (no set is the same size as the class of its subsets) and the Schröder-Bernstein theorem (if there are injections from each of two classes into the other, there is a bijection between them) have their standard proofs.

The Russell class can be shown to be the same size as the universe
using Schröder-Bernstein: the injection from *R* into
*V* is obvious, and *V* can be embedded into *R*
using the map *x*
{{*x*}, ∅} (clearly no
set {{*x*}, ∅} belongs to itself). So a class is proper
iff it is the same size as the universe (limitation of size).

Define the von Neumann ordinals as classes which are strictly well-ordered by membership. Each finite ordinal can be proved to be a set (because it is smaller than its successor and is a subclass of the Russell class). The class of all ordinals is not a set (but is the last ordinal), for the usual reasons, and so is the same size as the universe, and so the universe can be well-ordered.

There is an infinite ordinal, because there is an ordinal which can be
placed in one-to-one correspondence with one's favorite infinite set
*I*. Since there is an infinite ordinal, every finite ordinal
is a set and the first infinite ordinal ω is a set. It follows
that all infinite sets are countably infinite.

The power set of an infinite set *I* is not the same size as
*I* by Cantor's theorem, is certainly infinite, and so cannot
be a set, and so must be the same size as the universe. It follows by
usual considerations that the universe is the same size as
℘(ω) or as **R** (the set of real
numbers, defined in any of the usual ways), and its “cardinal” is
*c*. Further, the first uncountable ordinal
ω_{1} is the cardinality of the universe, so the
Continuum Hypothesis holds.

It is well-known that coding tricks allow one to do classical
mathematics without ever going above cardinality *c*: for
example, the class of *all* functions from the reals to the
reals, is too large to be even a proper class here, but the class of
*continuous* functions is of cardinality *c*. An
individual continuous function *f* might seem to be a proper
class, but it can be coded as a hereditarily countable set by (for
example) letting the countable set of pairs of rationals
<*p*, *q*> such that *p* <
*f*(*q*) code the function *f*. In fact, it is
claimed that most of classical mathematics can be carried out using
just natural numbers and sets of natural numbers (second-order
arithmetic) or in even weaker systems, so pocket set theory (having
the strength of *third* order arithmetic) can be thought to be
rather generous.

We do remark that it is not necessarily the case that the hypothetical advocate of pocket set theory thinks that the universe is small; he or she might instead think that the continuum is very large…

### 9.2 Vopenka's alternative set theory

Petr Vopenka has presented the following *alternative set
theory* (1979).

The theory has sets and classes. The following axioms hold of sets.

Extensionality:Sets with the same elements are the same.

Empty set:∅ exists.

Successor:For any setsxandy,x∪ {y} exists.

Induction:Every formula φ expressed in the language of sets only (all parameters are sets and all quantifiers are restricted to sets) and true of ∅ and true ofx∪ {y} if it is true ofxis true of all sets.

Regularity:Every set has an element disjoint from it.

The theory of sets appears to be the theory of
*V*_{ω} (the hereditarily finite
sets) in the usual set theory!

We now pass to consideration of classes.

Existence of classes:If φ(x) is any formula, then the class φ(x) of all setsxsuch that φ(x) exists. (The setxis identified with the class of elements ofx.) Note that Kuratowski pairs of sets are sets, and so we can define (class) relations and functions on the universe of sets much as usual.

Extensionality for classes:Classes with the same elements are equal.

Definition:Asemisetis a subclass of a set. Aproper classis a class which is not a set. Aproper semisetis a subclass of a set which is not a set.

Axiom of proper semisets:There is a proper semiset.

A proper semiset is a signal that the set which contains it is
nonstandard (recall that all sets *seem* to be hereditarily
finite!)

Definition:A set isfiniteiff all of its subclasses are sets.

A finite set has standard size (the use of “finite” here could be
confusing: all *sets* are nonstandard finite here, after
all).

Definition:An ordering of type ω is a class well-ordering which is infinite and all of whose initial segments are finite. A class is countable if it has an ordering of type ω.

An ordering of type ω has the same length as the
*standard* natural numbers. We can prove that there is such an
ordering: consider the order on the finite (i.e., standard finite) von
Neumann ordinals. There must be infinite von Neumann ordinals because
there is a set theoretically definable bijection between the von
Neumann ordinals and the whole universe of sets: any proper semiset
can be converted to a proper semiset of a set of von Neumann
ordinals.

Prolongation axiom:Each countable functionFcan be extended to a set function.

The Prolongation Axiom has a role similar to that of the
Standardization Axiom in the “nonstandard” set theory *IST*
above.

Vopenka considers representations of superclasses of classes using
relations on sets. A class relation *R* on a class *A*
is said to code the superclass of inverse images of elements of
*A* under *R*. A class relation *R* on a class
*A* is said to extensionally code this superclass if distinct
elements of *A* have distinct preimages. He “tidies up” the
theory of such codings by adopting the

Axiom of extensional coding:Every collection of classes which is codable is extensionally codable.

It is worth noting that this can be phrased in a way which makes no
reference to superclasses: for any class relation *R*, there is
a class relation *R*′ such that for any *x* there
is *x*′ with preimage under *R*′ equal to
the preimage of *x* under *R*, and distinct elements of
the field of *R*′ have distinct preimages.

His notion of coding is more general: we can further code collections
of classes by taking a pair <*K*, *R*> where
*K* is a subclass of the field of *R*; clearly any
collection of classes codable in this way can be extensionally coded
by using the axiom in the form I give.

The final axiom is

Axiom of cardinalities:If two classes are uncountable, they are the same size.

This implies (as in pocket set theory) that there are two infinite
cardinalities, which can be thought of as
ℵ_{0}
and *c*, though in this context their behavior is less
familiar than it is in pocket set theory. For example, the set of all
natural numbers (as Vopenka defines it) is of cardinality *c*,
while there is an initial segment of the natural numbers (the finite
natural numbers) which has the expected cardinality ω.

One gets the axiom of choice from the axioms of cardinalities and extensional codings; the details are technical. One might think that this would go as in pocket set theory: the order type of all the ordinals is not a set and so has the same cardinality as the universe. But this doesn't work here, because the “ordinals” in the obvious sense are all nonstandard finite ordinals, which, from a class standpoint, are not well-ordered at all. However, there is a devious way to code an uncountable well-ordering using the axiom of extensional coding, and since its domain is uncountable it must be the same size as the universe.

This is a rather difficult theory. A model of the alternative set
theory in the usual set theory is a nonstandard model of
*V*_{ω} of size ω_{1} in which
every countable external function extends to a function in the
model. It might be best to suppose that this model is constructed
inside *L* (the constructible universe) so that the axiom of
cardinalities will be satisfied. The axiom of extensional coding
follows from Choice in the ambient set theory.

The constructions of the natural numbers and the real numbers with
which we started go much as usual, except that we get two kinds of
natural numbers (the finite von Neumann ordinals in the set universe
(nonstandard), and the *finite* von Neumann set ordinals
(standard)). The classical reals can be defined as Dedekind cuts in
the standard rationals; these are not sets, but any real can then be
approximated by a nonstandard rational. One can proceed to do analysis
with some (but not quite all) of the tools of the usual nonstandard
analysis.

## 10. Double extension set theory: a curiosity.

A recent proposal of Andrzej Kisielewicz (1998) is that the paradoxes of set theory might be evaded by having two different membership relations ∈ and ε, with each membership relation used to define extensions for the other.

We present the axiomatics. The primitive notions of this theory are
equality (=) and the two flavors ∈ and ε of membership. A
formula φ is *uniform* if it does not mention ε. If
φ is a uniform formula, φ^{*} is the corresponding
formula with ∈ replaced by ε throughout.

A set *A* is *regular* iff it has the same extension
with respect to both membership relations: *x* ∈
*A* ≡ *x* ε *A*.

The comprehension axiom asserts that for any uniform formula φ
(*x*) in which all parameters (free variables other than
*x*) are regular, there is an object {*x* | φ
(*x*)} such that ∀*x*(*x* ∈
*A* ≡ φ^{*} & *x* ε
*A* ≡ φ).

The extensionality axiom asserts that for any *A* and
*B*, ∀*x*(*x* ∈ *A* ≡
*x* ε *B*) → *A* =
*B*. Notice that any object to which this axiom applies is
regular.

Finally, a special axiom asserts that any set one of whose extensions is included in a regular set is itself regular.

This theory can be shown to interpret *ZF* in the realm of
*hereditarily regular sets*. Formally, the proof has the same
structure as the proof for Ackermann set theory. It is unclear whether
this theory is actually consistent; natural ways to strengthen it
(including the first version proposed by Kisielewicz) turn out to be
inconsistent. It is also extremely hard to think about!

An example of the curious properties of this theory is that the ordinals under one membership relation are exactly the regular ordinals while under the other they are longer; this means that the apparent symmetry between the two membership relations breaks!

## 11. Conclusion

We have presented a wide range of theories here. The theories
motivated by essentially different views of the realm of mathematics
(the constructive theories and the theories which support nonstandard
analysis) we set to one side. Similarly, the theories motivated by the
desire to keep the universe small can be set to one side. The
alternative classical set theories which support a fluent development
of mathematics seem to be *ZFC* or its variants with classes
(including Ackermann), *NFU* + Infinity + Choice with suitable
strong infinity axioms (to get s.c. sets to behave nicely), and the
positive set theory of Esser. Any of these is adequate for the
purpose, in our opinion, including the one currently in use. There is
no compelling reason for mathematicians to use a different foundation
than *ZFC*; but there is a good reason for mathematicians who
have occasion to think about foundations to be aware that there are
alternatives; otherwise there is a danger that accidental features of
the dominant system of set theory will be mistaken for essential
features of any foundation of mathematics. For example, it is
frequently said that the universal set (an extension which is actually
trivially easy to obtain in a weak set theory) is an inconsistent
totality; the actual situation is merely that one cannot have a
universal set while assuming Zermelo's axiom of separation.

## Bibliography

- Aczel, P., 1978, “The Type Theoretic Interpretation of Constructive Set
Theory”, in A. MacIntyre, L. Pacholski, J. Paris (eds.),
*Logic Colloquium ‘77*, Amsterdam: North-Holland. - Aczel, P., 1982, “The Type Theoretic Interpretation of Constructive Set
Theory: Choice Principles”, in Troelstra, A. S., van Dalen,
D. (eds.),
*The L.E.J. Brouwer Centenary Symposium*, Amsterdam: North-Holland. - Aczel, P., 1986, “The Type Theoretic Interpretation of
Constructive Set Theory: Inductive Definitions”, in Marcus,
R. B. et al. (eds),
*Logic, Methodology, and Philosophy of Science VII*, Amsterdam: North-Holland. - Aczel, P., 1988,
*Non-well-founded sets*(CSLI Lecture Notes), Stanford: CSLI Publications. - St. Augustine,
*De civitate Dei*, Book 20, chapter 18. - Barwise, J., 1975,
*Admissible Sets and Structures*, Berlin: Springer-Verlag. - Boffa, M., 1988, “ZFJ and the consistency problem for
NF”,
*Jahrbuch der Kurt Gödel Gesellschaft*, Vienna, pp. 102–106 - Burali-Forti, C., 1897, “Una questione sui numeri transfiniti”,
*Rendiconti del Circolo matematico di Palermo*, 11: 154–164. A correction appears in “Sulle classi ben ordinate”,*Rendiconti del Circolo matematico di Palermo*, 11: 260. It is not clear that Burali-Forti ever correctly understood his paradox. - Cantor, G. 1872, “Über die Ausdehnung eines Satzes aus
der Theorie der trigonometrischen Reihen”,
*Mathematischen Annalen*, 5: 123–32. - Cantor, G. 1891, “Über eine elementare Frage der
Mannigfaltigkeitslehre”,
*Jahresbericht der deutschen Mathematiker-Vereiningung*, 1: 75–8. - Cocchiarella, N.B., 1985, “Frege's double-correlation thesis and Quine's
set theories NF and ML”,
*Journal of Philosophical Logic*, 14 (4): 253–326. - Marcel Crabbé, 1982, “On the consistency of an impredicative
subsystem of Quine's
*NF*,”*Journal of Symbolic Logic*, 47: 131–36. - Dedekind, R., 1872,
*Stetigkeit und irrationale Zahlen*, Brannschweig: Friedrich Vieweg und Sohn (2nd edition, 1892). - Esser, Olivier, 1999, “On the consistency of a positive theory.”,
*Mathematical Logic Quarterly*, 45 (1): 105–116. - Feferman, Sol, 2006, “Enriched stratified systems for the foundations of
category theory” in G. Sica (ed.),
*What is Category Theory?*, Milan: Polimetrica, [Preprint available online in PDF.] - Frege, G., 1884,
*Die Grundlagen der Arithmetik*, English translation by J. L. Austin,*The foundations of arithmetic*, Blackwell, Oxford, 1974. - Friedman, Harvey, 1973, “Some applications of Kleene's
methods for intuitionistic systems”, in A. Mathias and H. Rogers (eds.),
*Cambridge Summer School in Mathematical Logic*, Berlin: Springer-Verlag. - Grishin, V. N., 1969, “Consistency of a fragment of Quine's
*NF*system,”*Sov. Math. Dokl.*, 10: 1387–90. - Hallett, Michael, 1984,
*Cantorian set theory and limitation of size*, Oxford: Clarendon, pp. 280–286. - Holmes, M. Randall, 1998,
*Elementary Set Theory with a Universal Set*,*Cahiers du Centre de logique*(Volume 10), Louvain-la-Neuve: Academia. (See chapter 20 for the discussion of well-founded extensional relation types.) [Preprint of revised and corrected version available online (PDF).] - Jensen, Ronald Bjorn, 1969, “On the consistency of a slight (?)
modification of Quine's ‘New Foundations’,”
*Synthese*, 19: 250–63. - Kisielewicz, Andrzej, 1998, “A very strong set theory?”,
*Studia Logica*, 61: 171–178. - Kuratowski, Kazimierz, 1921, “Sur la notion de l'ordre dans la
théorie des ensembles”,
*Fundamenta Mathematicae*, 2: 161–171. - Levy, A., 1959, “On Ackermann's set
theory”.
*Journal of Symbolic Logic*, 24: 154–166. - Mac Lane, Saunders, 1986,
*Mathematics, Form and Function*, Berlin: Springer-Verlag. - Mathias A.R.D., 2001, “The strength of Mac Lane set
theory”,
*Annals of Pure and Applied Logic*, 110 (1): 107–234. - McLarty, Colin, 1992, “Failure of Cartesian closedness
in
*NF*,”*Journal of Symbolic Logic*, 57: 555–6. - Nelson, Edward, 1977, “Internal set theory, a new approach
to nonstandard analysis”,
*Bulletin of the American Mathematical Society*, 83: 1165–1198. - Quine, W. V. O., 1937, “New Foundations for Mathematical
Logic,”
*American Mathematical Monthly*, 44: 70–80. - Quine, W. V. O., 1945, “On ordered pairs,”
*Journal of Symbolic Logic*, 10: 95–96. - Reinhardt, W., 1970, “Ackermann's set theory equals
ZF”.
*Ann. of Math. Logic*, 2: 189–249 - Robinson, Abraham, 1966,
*Nonstandard Analysis*, Princeton: Princeton University Press. - Rosser, J. Barkley, 1973,
*Logic for Mathematicians*, second edition, New York: Chelsea. - Russell, B., 1903,
*The principles of mathematics*, London: George Allen and Unwin. - Whitehead, Alfred North, and Russell, Bertrand,
1910–1913,
*Principia Mathematica*(to *56), Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 1967. - Specker, E. P., 1953, “The axiom of choice in Quine's ‘New
Foundations for Mathematical Logic’,”
*Proceedings of the National Academy of Sciences of the U.S.A.*, 39: 972–5. - Spinoza,
*Ethics*, in*A Spinoza Reader: the Ethics and other works*, E. Curley (ed. and trans.), Princeton: Princeton University Press, 1994. - Tupailo, S., 2010, “Consistency of Strictly
Impredicative
**NF**and a Little More …”,*Journal of Symbolic Logic*, 75 (4): 1326–1338. - Vopenka, P., 1979,
*Mathematics in the alternative set theory*, Leipzig: Teubner-Verlag. - Wang, H., 1970,
*Logic, Computers, and Sets*, New York: Chelsea, p. 406. - Wiener, Norbert, 1914, “A simplification of the logic of
relations”.
*Proceedings of the Cambridge Philosophical Society*, 17: 387–390. - Zermelo, Ernst, 1908, “Untersuchen über die Grundlagen
der Mengenlehre I”.
*Mathematische Annalen*, 65: 261–281.

## Academic Tools

How to cite this entry. Preview the PDF version of this entry at the Friends of the SEP Society. Look up this entry topic at the Indiana Philosophy Ontology Project (InPhO). Enhanced bibliography for this entry at PhilPapers, with links to its database.

## Other Internet Resources

- Aczel, P., “Notes on Constructive Set Theory”, (Gzipped Postscript), written with Michael Rathjen, Mittag-Leffler Technical Report No. 40, 2000/2001.
- Holmes, M. Randall, Notes on Finsler Set Theory.

## Related Entries

Brouwer, Luitzen Egbertus Jan |
choice, axiom of |
continuity and infinitesimals |
Frege, Gottlob |
Frege, Gottlob: theorem and foundations for arithmetic |
logic: intuitionistic |
mathematics: constructive |
*Principia Mathematica* |
Quine, Willard van Orman: New Foundations |
Russell's paradox |
set theory |
type theory