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Alfred North Whitehead
Alfred North Whitehead (1861–1947) was a British mathematician, logician and philosopher best known for his work in mathematical logic and the philosophy of science. In collaboration with Bertrand Russell, he authored the landmark three-volume Principia Mathematica (1910, 1912, 1913) and contributed significantly to twentieth-century logic, philosophy of science and metaphysics.
Although there are important continuities throughout his career, Whitehead's intellectual life is often divided into three main periods. The first corresponds roughly with his time at Cambridge, from 1884 to 1910. It was during these years that he worked primarily on issues in mathematics and logic. It was also during this time that he collaborated with Russell. The second main period, from 1910 to 1924, corresponds with his time at London. During these years Whitehead concentrated mainly, but not exclusively, on issues in the philosophy of science and the philosophy of education. The third main period corresponds roughly with his time at Harvard, from 1924 onward. It was during this time that he worked on more general issues in philosophy, including the development of a comprehensive metaphysical system which has come to be known as process philosophy.
- 1. Whitehead's Chronology
- 2. Whitehead's Influence
- Other Internet Resources
- Related Entries
A short chronology of the major events in Whitehead's life is as follows:
- 1861 — Born February 15 in Ramsgate, Isle of Thanet, Kent, England.
- 1880 — Enters Trinity College, Cambridge, with a scholarship in mathematics.
- 1884 — Elected a Fellow in Mathematics at Trinity.
- 1891 — Marries Evelyn Wade.
- 1903 — Elected a Fellow of the Royal Society as a result his work on universal algebra.
- 1910 — Moves to University College London.
- 1914 — Appointed Professor of Applied Mathematics at the Imperial College of Science and Technology.
- 1924 — Appointed Professor of Philosophy at Harvard University.
- 1931 — Elected a Fellow of the British Academy.
- 1937 — Retires from Harvard.
- 1945 — Awarded Order of Merit.
- 1947 — Dies December 30 in Cambridge, Massachusetts, USA.
For a chronology of Whitehead's major publications, readers are encouraged to consult Whitehead's Writings below.
Whitehead's philosophical influence can be felt in all three of the main areas in which he worked (i.e., logic and the foundations of mathematics, the philosophy of science and metaphysics) as well as in other areas including ethics, education and religion.
Whitehead began his academic career at Trinity College, Cambridge, where, starting in 1885, he taught for twenty-five years. In 1890, Bertrand Russell arrived as a student at Trinity and, during the 1890s, the two men came into regular contact with one another. According to Russell, “Whitehead was extraordinarily perfect as a teacher” and Whitehead soon became something of a mentor to the younger man (1952, 52).
By the early 1900s, both men had completed books on the foundations of mathematics. Whitehead's 1898 A Treatise on Universal Algebra had resulted in his election to the Royal Society. Russell's 1903 The Principles of Mathematics was equally significant, marking a decisive break from Russell's earlier neo-Kantian work, exemplified by his 1897 An Essay on the Foundations of Geometry. Since the research for a proposed second volume of Russell's Principles overlapped considerably with Whitehead's own research for the planned second volume of his Universal Algebra, the two men began collaboration on what was eventually to become Principia Mathematica (1910, 1912, 1913). According to Whitehead, they initially expected the research to take about a year to complete. In the end, they worked together on the project for a decade.
Logicism, the theory that mathematics is in some important sense reducible to logic, consists of two main theses. The first is that all mathematical truths can be translated into logical truths or, in other words, that the vocabulary of mathematics constitutes a proper subset of the vocabulary of logic. The second is that all mathematical proofs can be recast as logical proofs or, in other words, that the theorems of mathematics constitute a proper subset of the theorems of logic.
Like Gottlob Frege, Whitehead and Russell took the view that numbers could be identified with sets of sets, and that number-theoretic operations could be explained in terms of set theoretic operations such as intersection, union, and difference. Although Whitehead and Russell were able to provide numerous detailed derivations of major theorems in set theory, finite and transfinite arithmetic, and elementary measure theory, the issue of whether set theory itself can be said to have been successfully reduced to logic remained controversial.
Following the completion of Principia, Whitehead and Russell began to go their separate ways. Perhaps inevitably, Russell's anti-war activities and Whitehead's loss of his youngest son during World War I led to something of a split between the two men. Nevertheless, they remained on relatively good terms for the rest of their lives.
At the University of London, Whitehead turned his attention to issues in the philosophy of science. Of particular note was his rejection of the idea that each object has a simple spatial or temporal location. Instead, Whitehead advocated the view that all objects should be understood as fields having both temporal and spatial extensions. For example, just as we cannot perceive a Euclidean point that is said to have position but no magnitude, or a line that is said to have length but no breadth, it is impossible, says Whitehead, to conceive of a simple spatial or temporal location. To think that we can do so involves what he called “The Fallacy of Misplaced Concreteness,” the error of mistaking the abstract for the concrete (1925, 64, 72).
As Whitehead explains, “among the primary elements of nature as apprehended in our immediate experience, there is no element whatever which possesses this character of simple location. … [Instead,] I hold that by a process of constructive abstraction we can arrive at abstractions which are the simply located bits of material, and at other abstractions which are the minds included in the scientific scheme” (1925, 72; cf. 1919, Pt 3).
Whitehead's basic thought was that we obtain the abstract idea of a spatial point by considering the limit of a real-life series of volumes extending over each other, for example in much the same way that we might consider a nested series of Russian dolls or a nested series of pots and pans. However, it would be a mistake to think of a spatial point as being anything more than an abstraction; instead, real positions involve the entire series of extended volumes. As Whitehead puts it, “In a certain sense, everything is everywhere at all times. For every location involves an aspect of itself in every other location. Thus every spatio-temporal standpoint mirrors the world” (1925, 114).
Further, according to Whitehead, every real-life object may be understood as a similarly constructed series of events and processes. It is this latter idea that Whitehead later systematically elaborates in his Process and Reality (1929c), going so far as to suggest that process, rather than substance, should be taken as the fundamental metaphysical constituent of the world:
That ‘all things flow’ is the first vague generalization which the unsystematized, barely analysed, intuition of men has produced.… Without doubt, if we are to go back to that ultimate, integral experience, unwarped by the sophistications of theory, that experience whose elucidation is the final aim of philosophy, the flux of things is one ultimate generalization around which we must weave our philosophical system. (1929c, Pt 2, Ch. 10, sec. 1, p. 317)
Underlying this work was also the idea that, if philosophy is to be successful, it must explain the connection between objective, scientific and logical descriptions of the world and the more everyday world of subjective experience. (For example, see especially 1929c, Pt 2, Ch. 9, sec. 2.)
While at London, Whitehead also became involved in many practical aspects of tertiary education, serving as Dean of the Faculty of Science and holding several other administrative posts. Many of the essays in his book The Aims of Education and Other Essays (1929a) date from this time. It was also during his time in London that Whitehead published several less well-known books, including An Inquiry Concerning the Principles of Natural Knowledge (1919), The Concept of Nature (1920), and The Principle of Relativity (1922).
Upon being offered an appointment at Harvard, Whitehead moved to the United States in 1924. Given his prior training in mathematics and in the physical sciences, it was sometimes joked that the first philosophy lectures he ever attended were those that he himself delivered at Harvard in his new role as Professor of Philosophy. A year later he also delivered Harvard's prestigious Lowell Lectures which formed the basis for his first primarily metaphysical book, Science and the Modern World (1925). In it, he introduces several themes that later found fuller expression in Process and Reality. The same is true of the 1927/28 Gifford Lectures at the University of Edinburgh on which Process and Reality eventually came to be based.
In Process and Reality, rather than assuming substance as the basic metaphysical category, Whitehead introduces a new metaphysically primitive notion that he calls an actual occasion. On Whitehead's view, an actual occasion is not an enduring substance, but a process of becoming. As Donald Sherburne points out, “It is customary to compare an actual occasion with a Leibnizian monad, with the caveat that whereas a monad is windowless, an actual occasion is ‘all window.’ It is as though one were to take Aristotle's system of categories and ask what would result if the category of substance were displaced from its preeminence by the category of relation …” (Sherburne 1995, 852). As Whitehead himself puts it, his “philosophy of organism is the inversion of Kant's philosophy … For Kant, the world emerges from the subject; for the philosophy of organism, the subject emerges from the world” (quoted in Sherburne 1995, 852).
Significantly, this view runs counter to more traditional views of material substance: “There persists,” says Whitehead, “[a] fixed scientific cosmology which presupposes the ultimate fact of an irreducible brute matter, or material, spread through space in a flux of configurations. In itself such a material is senseless, valueless, purposeless. It just does what it does do, following a fixed routine imposed by external relations which do not spring from the nature of its being. It is this assumption that I call ‘scientific materialism.’ Also it is an assumption which I shall challenge as being entirely unsuited to the scientific situation at which we have now arrived” (1925, 22).
The assumption of scientific materialism is effective in many contexts, says Whitehead, only because it directs our attention to a certain class of problems that lend themselves to analysis within this framework. However, scientific materialism is less successful when addressing issues of teleology and when trying to develop a comprehensive, integrated picture of the universe as a whole. According to Whitehead, recognition that the world is organic rather than materialistic is therefore essential for anyone wanting to develop a comprehensive account of nature, and this change in viewpoint can result as easily from attempts to understand modern physics as from attempts to understand human psychology and teleology. Says Whitehead, “Mathematical physics presumes in the first place an electromagnetic field of activity pervading space and time. The laws which condition this field are nothing else than the conditions observed by the general activity of the flux of the world, as it individualises itself in the events” (1925, 190). The end result is that “nature is a structure of evolving processes. The reality is the process” (1925, 90).
Whitehead's ultimate attempt to develop a metaphysical unification of space, time, matter, events and teleology has proved to be controversial. In part, this may be because of the connections Whitehead saw between his metaphysics and traditional theism. According to Whitehead, religion is concerned with permanence amid change, and can be found in the ordering we find within nature, something he sometimes called the “primordial nature of God” (1929c, Pt 5, Ch. 2, secs 1-7). Thus although not especially influential among contemporary Anglo-American secular philosophers, his metaphysical ideas continue to have significant influence among many theologians and philosophers of religion.
Whitehead's principal publications include the following:
- (1898) A Treatise on Universal Algebra, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
- (1906a) On Mathematical Concepts of the Material World, London: Dulau.
- (1906b) The Axioms of Projective Geometry, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
- (1907) The Axioms of Descriptive Geometry, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
- (1910, 1912, 1913) (with Bertrand Russell) Principia Mathematica, 3 vols, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press. Second edition, 1925 (Vol. 1), 1927 (Vols 2, 3). Abridged as Principia Mathematica to *56, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 1962.
- (1911) An Introduction to Mathematics, London: Williams and Norgate.
- (1919) An Enquiry concerning the Principles of Natural Knowledge, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
- (1920) The Concept of Nature, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
- (1922) The Principle of Relativity with Applications to Physical Science, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
- (1925) Science and the Modern World, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 1926.
- (1926) Religion in the Making, New York: Macmillan.
- (1927) Symbolism, Its Meaning and Effect, New York: Macmillan.
- (1929a) The Aims of Education and Other Essays, New York: Macmillan.
- (1929b) The Function of Reason, Princeton: Princeton University Press.
- (1929c) Process and Reality, New York: Macmillan.
- (1933) Adventures of Ideas, New York: New American.
- (1934) Nature and Life, Chicago: University of Chicago Press.
- (1938) Modes of Thought, New York: Macmillan.
- (1947a) Essays in Science and Philosophy, New York: Philosophical Library.
- (1947b) The Wit and Wisdom of Whitehead, Boston: Beacon Press.
- Bright, Laurence (1958) Whitehead's Philosophy of Physics, London: Sheed and Ward.
- Cobb, John B. (1965) A Christian Natural Theology, Based on the Thought of Alfred North Whitehead, Philadelphia: Westminster Press.
- Connelly, Robert Joseph (1981) Whitehead vs Hartshorne, Washington, D.C.: University Press of America.
- Dunkel, Harold Baker (1965) Whitehead on Education, Columbus: Ohio State University Press.
- Emmet, Dorothy Mary (1932) Whitehead's Philosophy of Organism, 2nd edition, London: Macmillan, 1966.
- Gabbay, Dov M., and John Woods (eds) (2009) Handbook of the History of Logic: Volume 5—Logic From Russell to Church, Amsterdam: Elsevier/North Holland.
- Hartshorne, Charles (1972) Whitehead's Philosophy: Selected Essays, 1935-1970, Lincoln: University of Nebraska Press.
- Irvine, A.D. (ed.) (2009) Philosophy of Mathematics, Amsterdam: Elsevier/North Holland.
- Johnson, A.H. (1952) Whitehead's Theory of Reality, Boston: Beacon Press.
- ––– (1973) Experiential Realism, London: George Allen and Unwin.
- Kline, George Louis (1963) Alfred North Whitehead, Englewood Cliffs, N.J.: Prentice-Hall.
- Lango, John W. (1972) Whitehead's Ontology, Albany: State University of New York Press.
- Lawrence, Nathaniel Morris (1956) Whitehead's Philosophical Development, Berkeley: University of California Press.
- Lowe, Victor (1962) Understanding Whitehead, Baltimore: Johns Hopkins University Press.
- ––– (1985) Alfred North Whitehead, Baltimore: Johns Hopkins University Press.
- Lucas, George R. (1989) The Rehabilitation of Whitehead, Albany: State University of New York Press.
- Nobo, Jorge Luis (1986) Whitehead's Metaphysics of Extension and Solidarity, Albany: State University of New York Press.
- Pittenger, W. Norman (1969) Alfred North Whitehead, Richmond: John Knox Press.
- Pols, Edward (1967) Whitehead's Metaphysics, Carbondale: Southern Illinois University Press.
- Quine, Willard Van Orman (1941) “Whitehead and the Rise of Modern Logic,” in Schilpp, Paul Arthur (ed.) The Philosophy of Alfred North Whitehead, La Salle: Open Court, 125-164.
- Ross, Stephen David (1983) Perspectives in Whitehead's Metaphysics, Albany: State University of New York Press.
- Russell, Bertrand (1903) The Principles of Mathematics, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
- ––– (1948) “Whitehead and Principia Mathematica,” Mind, 57, 137-138.
- ––– (1952) “Alfred North Whitehead,” The Listener, 48 (10 July), 51-52. Revised and reprinted in Russell, Bertrand, Portraits From Memory, New York: Simon and Schuster, 1956, 99-104; and in Russell, Bertrand, The Autobiography of Bertrand Russell, Vol. 1, London: George Allen and Unwin, 1967, 127-130.
- Schilpp, Paul Arthur (1941) The Philosophy of Alfred North Whitehead, La Salle: Open Court.
- Shapiro, Stewart (ed.) (2005) The Oxford Handbook of Philosophy of Mathematics and Logic, Oxford: Oxford University Press.
- Sherburne, Donald W. (1966) A Key to Whitehead's Process and Reality, New York: Macmillan.
- Sherburne, Donald W. (1995) “Whitehead, Alfred North,” in Robert Audi (ed.), The Cambridge Dictionary of Philosophy, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
- Principia Mathematica: Whitehead and Russell
- University of St Andrew's MacTutor History of Mathematics Archive: Alfred North Whitehead