#### Supplement to Rudolf Carnap

## G. *Logical Syntax of Language*

The *Logical Syntax of Language* appeared in 1934 (the modified
English translation in 1937). It is Carnap’s best-known book,
though its reception has been tortuous. The main features of the book
itself and its reception history are discussed in the
main entry (Section 5)
on Carnap; the story of Carnap’s path from the *Aufbau*
to the *Syntax* is described in section 4 of that entry
(including the inspirations that Carnap took from Wittgenstein’s
work). The literature on the *Syntax* is enormous and growing,
addressing many different aspects of the book. We confine ourselves
here to a bird’s-eye overview of the book’s five parts and
some of its notable features. Carnap’s famous principle of
tolerance in the *Logical Syntax* and some of its applications
to the (meta-)linguistic reconstruction of metaphysical sentences are
explained in sections 1 and 2 of the supplement on
Tolerance, Metaphysics, and Meta-Ontology,
as is Gödel’s criticism of the principle and of
Carnap’s syntactical account of mathematics more generally (see
the supplement on
Tolerance, Metaphysics, and Meta-Ontology (Section 1)).
Carnap’s extensionality thesis in the *Logical Syntax*
(§§63–71 of the *Logical Syntax*), including
his treatment of so-called “quasi-syntactical sentences”
(§§ 63–64), is discussed in the supplement on
Semantics (Section 2).

The stated aim of the *Logical Syntax* is to show that logic is
syntactical, that is, that it consists in formal theories of
linguistic symbols. A theory is “formal”, Carnap says when

no reference is made in it to either the meaning of the symbols (for example, the words) or to the sense of the expressions (e.g., the sentences), but simply and solely to the kinds and order of the symbols from which the expressions are constructed. (LSS: 1)

The idea had been suggested by Hilbert’s metamathematics, which
Carnap regarded as “the syntax of the mathematical
language” (§2), and which Carnap sought to extend to the
whole of scientific knowledge—a logical syntax of the
*language(s) of science*. The methods by which he aimed to
carry out this program are mainly taken from the metamathematics of
mathematical theories, such as Gödel’s arithmetization of
the syntax of mathematical theories, which played a central role in
Part II of the book. But Carnap reiterates in the book’s final
sections that the main purpose of the formal and semi-formal
constructions in *Logical Syntax* is their application to
empirical science.

This said, the two main examples of formal languages developed by
Carnap in the *Logical Syntax* are nonetheless motivated by
considerations from the foundations of *mathematics*. Language
I is a version of primitive recursive arithmetic, which he takes to
exemplify a constructivist-finitist kind of language; while Language
II, which contains Language I as a sublanguage, comprises substantial
parts of the language of classical mathematics, including real
analysis and portions of set theory. Ultimately, Carnap wants to claim
that neither the classical logicians/mathematicians nor the
intuitionists are “right” about mathematics: no fact of
the matter is going to settle their dispute, as both offer possible
forms of mathematical languages suitable for particular purposes.

Of the book’s five parts, the first three are taken up with the
construction and study of these two languages. Part I present Language
I in the same way in which the syntax of formal languages is defined
and explained in a modern logic textbook, that is, semi-formally. Part
III does the same for Language II. Part II presents Language I in a
completely arithmetized, and in this sense, formalized manner; and its
metalanguage, which specifies the syntax of Language I, may be
formalized itself. The machinery by which syntax may be represented
arithmetically had just been introduced by Gödel as a means for
proving his celebrated two incompleteness theorems, and Carnap was the
first to apply the same technique in a philosophical context. By
reconstructing syntactic concepts as arithmetical concepts and
syntactic laws as arithmetical laws, much of the syntax of Language I
could be developed within Language I itself (though not all of
it—see the discussion of deriv*ability* below).

Throughout the *Syntax*, Carnap distinguishes clearly between
the object languages that he constructs and studies, and the
metalanguage in which he carries out his investigations; and he claims
that neglecting the corresponding use-mention distinction has led
previous authors astray (LSS: 18, §42). When we speak of
“languages” here, we follow Carnap’s usage in the
*Syntax*, but it should be kept in mind that these languages do
not merely involve vocabularies and syntactic formation rules but also
axioms, definitions, and “rules of transformation” (that
is, rules of inference). Hence, in the present sense of these terms,
they are really axiomatized *theories* or “calculi”
(§2). (Other authors at the time, e.g., Tarski, used the term
“language” in a similar manner.)

Carnap’s so-called “definite” Language I is characterized by the following three features: all of its primitive or defined predicates are decidable; its quantifiers are restricted (as in “for all \(n \lt 7\), it holds that…” or “there is an \(n \lt 7\), such that…”); and its variables are meant to range over natural numbers (that is, variables may be instantiated by numerals). The only way to express unbounded universal quantifiers is by means of free variables, which are regarded as universally bound “from the outside”.

In contrast, the “indefinite” Language II also includes indefinite concepts—open formulas that are not decidable—it allows for unrestricted quantification, and it includes variables of all types recognized by (a version of) the simple theory of types, including higher-order variables for properties, relations, and functions, all of them defined over the first-order domain of natural numbers. Once real numbers have been identified with classes or properties of natural numbers (corresponding, e.g., to the binary expansions of real numbers), Language II may also be thought of as quantifying over real numbers.

We turn now to the logical symbols in both languages, which are the
ones that are still common today, that is, propositional connectives
and quantifiers. When Carnap speaks of their meaning, he takes their
meaning to be determined by their underlying rules of inference.
Provisionally, he says, one may also explain the meaning of logical
connectives by translating them into natural language or by giving
truth tables, though he thinks of these two methods as being less
exact (see §5). At the same time, he tries to avoid speaking of
the “meaning” of logical symbols at all, restricting
himself, to the extent possible, to purely syntactical matters. In
contemporary terminology: Carnap adopts a version of
*proof-theoretic semantics* for logical operators (see entry on
proof-theoretic semantics
for a survey) and hence a version of *logical inferentialism*
(section 1.2 of Schroeder-Heister 2012 [2018]: “Proof-theoretic
semantics… belongs to inferentialism”); see Peregrin
(forthcoming) for more on Carnap’s inferentialism. In §5
Carnap says about the logical connectives: “In a strictly
formally constructed system, the meaning of these symbols…
arises out of the rules of transformation” (that is, the rules
of inference). When he speaks of meaning here, he does not refer to
any of the prevailing philosophical theories of meaning at the time,
but meaning as it is understood now in modern proof-theoretic
semantics: *inferential* meaning, “*semantics in terms
of proof*” (Schroeder-Heister 2012 [2018]), such that the
inferential *rules define* the logical connectives (compare
Gentzen 1934/1935). Carnap does admit *talk of* meaning in the
*Logical Syntax* but “the relations of meaning between
the sentences are given by means of the rules of consequence”
and

in order to determine whether or not one sentence is a consequence of another, no reference need to be made to the meaning of sentences… It is sufficient that the syntactical design of the sentences be given. (LSS: §71)

Accordingly, in later parts of the *Logical Syntax*, he
explains how certain sentences about meaning in the “material
mode of speech” can be reconstructed more properly as sentences
about syntax that are formulated in the “formal mode of
speech” (§75), by which philosophical confusions can be
avoided (§78); which is also why, ideally, talk of meaning should
in any case be eschewed in favor of talk of syntax. As he argues and
tries to work out in some detail in Part IV of the *Logical
Syntax* (to which we will return below), the content of a class of
sentences can be defined by the class of non-valid sentences that
follow jointly from its members *as determined by the rules of
transformation*, logical and descriptive vocabulary can be
distinguished *as determined by the rules of transformation*,
variables can be distinguished from constants *as determined by the
rules of transformation*, and so forth. Even after Carnap made the
transition to Tarskian semantics soon after the publication of the
*Logic Syntax*, he retained an inferentialist understanding of
*scientific theoretical terms*: in contrast with observational
terms, which he regarded as fully semantically interpreted in a
Tarskian manner, Carnap considered theoretical terms as only partially
interpreted through their inferential links to each other and to
observational terms, where these inferential links were constituted by
the deductive structure of the scientific theory by which these
theoretical terms are introduced; see supplement on
Reconstruction of Scientific Theories
for the details. To this day, Carnap’s extremely rich and
detailed inferentialist understanding of logic in his *Logical
Syntax* and its ramifications in his later work in the philosophy
of science have not been properly acknowledged even by the
proof-theoretic semantics community (with the exception of Peregrin
forthcoming), although the *Logical Syntax* predates all of the
standard references in proof-theoretic semantics except for Gentzen
(1934/1935), which appeared in the same year.

As far as their mathematical vocabularies are concerned, both Language
I and Language II include the vocabulary of arithmetic as well as a
primitive “least number” operator (the *K* operator);
e.g., ‘\((Kx) 9 \textit{Gr}(x, 7)\)’ would stand for the
least natural number less than or equal to 9 that is greater than 7
(and thus denotes 8). All of the *primitive* arithmetical
predicates in the two languages are decidable. In Language II,
additional symbols of the calculus are definable which are not
decidable. (For all practical purposes, Carnap distinguishes the
mathematical symbols from the logical ones, as we would do now,
although he does not distinguish them on more systematic grounds in
his later Part IV on general syntax, and he remarks in of Part V (LSS:
327) that so far no one has given a precise demarcation. When in
§50 he seeks to define an exact distinction between logical terms
and descriptive terms, based solely on the rules of inference that one
starts from, he counts the mathematical terms amongst the logical
ones, not the descriptive ones.)

Over and above their role for mathematics proper, Carnap employs
numerals as names for coordinates by which *physical locations*
or the *physical objects at these locations* can be identified
(much like houses may be identified through house numbers); so, number
terms replace the standard proper names of ordinary language. (He
continued to emphasize the mathematical representatibilty of empirical
structures throughout his career; see supplement on
Reconstruction of Scientific Theories (Section 4).)
This is in line with Carnap’s view of mathematics as being an
aid to operating with empirical sentences (p. 11), and with his
conviction that linguistic progress is often tied to an increased
mathematization of language (p. 12). In addition, both Language I and
II are meant to be extended by primitive descriptive predicates and
function symbols for empirical properties, relations, and functions,
although Carnap leaves the details open. (A first step in this
direction came in “Testability and Meaning”
(1936–37), discussed in the
main entry
and in the supplement on
Reconstruction of Scientific Theories.)
For instance, a quaternary predicate *T* would be used to
formulate the atomic formula ‘\(T(0, 8, 4, 3)\)’ by which
one would express that the temperature at position 0 is just as much
higher than that at position 8 as the temperature at position 4 is
higher than that at position 3 (see LSS: 13).

With their vocabularies and formation rules in place, Carnap’s next step is to formulate the transformation rules—the axioms (or axiom schemata), definitions, and rules of inference—of the two languages. Defined symbols are introduced either by explicit or recursive (“regressive”) definitions. As far as Language I is concerned, these definitions may only involve bounded quantifiers or free variables (with a universal interpretation), while in Language II recursive definitions may always be replaced by (higher-order) explicit definitions (following methods already used by Frege).

In the case of Language I, the transformation rules include axioms and
definitions for (classical) propositional logic, the bounded
quantifiers, identity, the arithmetical successor symbol, and the
*K* (least number) operator. In Part II of the *Logical
Syntax*, the usual explicit definitions of the numerals and the
standard recursive definitions for addition, multiplication, power,
and the factorial function are added (still belonging to Language I).
The rules of inference concern substitutions as well as complete
induction over natural numbers formulated as a *rule* of
inference. Carnap also describes in Part II how the system may be
extended by physical axioms and rules (which he calls
“P-rules”), and by correlative definitions relating
primitive symbols of the language with expressions from physics or
everyday language (§25). (Carnap will later replace these
correlative definitions by what he would call correspondence rules;
see supplement on
Reconstruction of Scientific Theories (Section 4).)
The P-rules might, e.g., include universal law hypotheses from
physics or even empirical observation sentences. But all of the
transformation rules of Languages I and II themselves are so-called
“L-rules”, that is, “rules of transformation that on
a material interpretation can be represented as having a
logico-mathematical basis” (LSS: 180).

Language II extends (and partially renders unnecessary) the axioms and
rules of Language I by adopting the simple theory of types, the
*principle* (rather than the rule) of complete induction over
natural numbers, and numerous additional definitions.

On that basis, Carnap is able to define metalinguistically the usual
syntactic notion of *derivability* for both languages in
semi-formal terms, more or less as is now done in logic textbooks; all
of the axioms of real analysis, for instance, can be shown to be
derivable from the axioms, definitions, and rules of Language II. In
Part II, Carnap demonstrates that using arithmetization, predicates
such as ‘*x* is a derivation of *y* from
*z*’ are even definable in the formally precise
arithmetical terms of Language I itself, whereas ‘*y* is
deriv*able* from *z*’ is not definable in Language I
due to the absence of an unbounded existential quantifier (§23).
However, the definitions of deriv*ability* for both languages
may be formalized in the more expressive Language II.

Carnap distinguishes the standard syntactic notion of derivability
from the concept of *consequence*, which we would now regard as
a semantic concept, but which Carnap defines for Language I by
invoking an additional *syntactic* though *infinitary*
rule that is now often called the “omega-rule” or even
“Carnap’s rule” (Carnap himself ascribes it
correctly to Hilbert, §48):

That is: from the infinitely many premises \(A[0],\) \(A[1],\)
\(A[2]\),… one may derive \(A[x]\). (Since \(A[x]\) is
implicitly universally quantified, one effectively derives the
universally quantified statement \(\forall xA[x]\)). It follows from
the Incompleteness Theorems that if consequence is defined in terms of
derivability with the omega-rule, its extension must exceed
derivability: indeed, in Part III of the *Logical Syntax*,
Carnap presents a semantic version (concerning arithmetical truth) of
the Diagonalization Lemma (§35, which is why he is often credited
with discovering the lemma in its general form, of which Gödel
had only proved a special instance): he applies it to derive
(§36) a semantic version of Gödel’s first
Incompleteness Theorem, he discusses the second Incompleteness
Theorem, and he draws some general conclusions from them. (For more on
Carnap’s back and forth between syntax and semantics in his
*Logical Syntax* see the
main entry (Section 5.1)
on Carnap.)

In Part I, Carnap defines a sentence of Language I to be
*analytic* just in case it is a consequence of the empty set.
The definitions of analyticity and consequence for Language II in Part
III (§34–36) are more difficult, because Language II is
more complex: effectively, Carnap’s definition of analyticity
involves a “quasi-Tarskian” recursive definition of truth
(compare Awodey 2007), and the (subsequent) definition of consequence
amounts to truth preservation for all possible evaluations based on
the first-order domain of (numerals for) natural numbers. Indeed, in
§2.1 of Tarski (1936 [2002]), Tarski regards Carnap’s
definition of consequence as *semantic* and acknowledges that

The first attempt at the formulation of a precise definition for the proper concept of following comes from R. Carnap; this attempt however is quite essentially tied to the specific properties of the formalized language which was selected as object of the investigation. (that is, Carnap’s Language II)

And in §2.8 Tarski (1936 [2002]) says about his own
model-theoretic definition of logical consequence that “it is
not difficult to bring the proposed definition closer to the
definition, already known to us, of Carnap” and adds later that
“On the basis of these agreements and assumptions it is easy to
establish that the two cited definitions are equivalent”, though
Tarski’s definition is applicable to a broader range of
formalized languages than Carnap’s. Just as truth *for* a
language *L* cannot be defined along Tarskian lines *in*
*L* (Tarski 1933 [1935]), Carnap’s definition of
consequence *for* Language II requires a more expressive
language than Language II, as Carnap demonstrates in Part III.
(Carnap’s notion(s) of analyticity and Quine’s criticism
of it are discussed in the supplement on
Carnap versus Quine on the Analytic-Synthetic Distinction.)

In part IV of the *Syntax*, Carnap returns to this distinction
between derivability and consequence on more general grounds. The aim
here is to sketch a template for “general syntax” by
giving a framework for the syntactical development of any language
whatsoever. (This is much like §§103–105 in the
*Aufbau*, where Carnap had suggested that there might be
general rules of constitution that would guide the construction of
definitions in *any* constitution system whatsoever—but
he offered this only as a tentative proposal and labeled the
corresponding sections as “may be omitted”.) The idea is
to start from a set of transformation rules, i.e., a given set of
rules of “direct inference”, on some formal language, and
to determine, just on that basis,

the distinction between logical and descriptive symbols, between variables and constants, and further,between logical[L-rules]and extra-logical (physical) transformation rules[P-rules]. (§46)

On the same inferential basis, “d-terms” (derivable,
proof, demonstrable, refutable, decidable) would be distinguished from
the “c-terms” (consequence, valid, contravalid,
determinate, incompatible, content, synonymous)—see
§47–48—even though all of them are considered
“syntactic”. (Whenever Carnap wants to restrict
consequence to *logical* consequence, excluding the application
of *P*-rules, he speaks of *L*-consequence.) For the modern
reader this raises the question whether “syntactic” (or
“formal”) still conforms to Carnap’s initial
“no reference is made… to the meaning of the
symbols” characterization (§1 of *Logical Syntax*);
after all, as Carnap recognized himself later, syntax in
Carnap’s 1934 sense seems to includes much of what we would call
“semantics” now. Indeed (see Wagner 2009: 22), Languages I
and II are not actually purely “formal” in our modern
sense at all—they are *interpreted* languages. While the
syntactic method, as Carnap conceives of it, requires semantic
interpretations to be disregarded, a particular fixed interpretation
remains in place. Carnap often refers to the import of some syntactic
result or attribute “in material interpretation”
(“*bei inhaltlicher Deutung*”) (e.g., §11),
and the material interpretation sometimes slips in to play a role in
the argument. In §60b he even deals explicitly with the semantic
concepts of truth and falsity, he proves the inconsistency of the
unrestricted truth scheme in the presence of what we now call a Liar
cycle (a sentence *A* claiming a sentence *B* to be true,
while *B* claims *A* to be false), and he sketches an
axiomatic theory of truth. (The book was published before
Tarski’s work on truth appeared in German, and he does not cite
it or rely on it.) But Carnap also rejects this approach, as in his
view truth and falsity were not “proper syntactical
properties”, and recommends instead that they be replaced or
approximated by purely syntactic concepts. Similarly, in §62, he
deals with the interpretation of formal languages but then defines
interpretation in terms of syntactic translations from one language
into another (akin to the modern model-theoretic notion of relative
interpretation). This character of the *Logical Syntax* as a
transitional work between syntax and semantics raises many subtle
interpretative and historical issues that require distillation of the
actual argument from the (often newly-invented) terminology in which
it is embedded. Fortunately, a detailed guide to many of these issues
is now available in Pierre Wagner’s (2009) handbook on the
*Logical Syntax*.

One feature of Part IV on “General Syntax” that attracted
special attention was the attempt, in §50, at a general
definition of *logicality*, irrespective of the particular
features of a language, and the concomitant attempt to distinguish
“logical” and “descriptive” sentences in a
completely general manner. Suppressing some of the details, the basic
thought was to define those sentences as logical that only consist of
logical symbols, and to define the set of logical symbols to be the
intersection of all maximal sets *S* of symbols that have the
property that every sentence *A* constructed from members of
*S* is either a consequence of the empty set (in which case
*A* is valid) or every sentence is a consequence of *A* (in
which case *A* is, in the terms defined in §48,
“contravalid”). This is meant to reflect that,
pre-theoretically,

all the connections between logico-mathematical terms are independent of extra-linguistic factors, such as, for instance, empirical observations, and that they must be solely and completely determined by the transformation rules of the language. (LSS: 177)

Unfortunately, as Mac Lane (1938) showed in his review of the
*Logical Syntax*, Carnap’s definition of logical
expressions does not work, since there may not be maximal sets of
symbols with the required properties, and even if there are, in some
cases their intersection may not deliver the set of symbols that we
would have regarded as logical *pre-*general-syntax. (See also
Awodey 2007, 2017; other counterexamples to Carnap’s definition
of logicality can be found in Quine 1960b and Creath 1996b: see Bonnay
2009 for a survey and evaluation.) Another consequence of
Carnap’s account is that higher-order existence claims couched
in purely logical terms count as logical, even when today we would be
more inclined to view them as *mathematical* existence claims.
This is consistent with Carnap’s continuing endorsement in
§84 of Fregean logicism in the *Syntax*, though in a
different form; the goal of logicism is now formulated as follows:

the task of the logical foundation of mathematics is not achieved solely by a metamathematics, i.e., a syntax of mathematics, but rather by a syntax of the entire language that comprises both logico-mathematical and synthetic sentences.

Carnap himself soon renounced his definitions of logicality, and in
his *Introduction to Semantics* (1942: 247), he says that the
most important change to *Logical Syntax* “concerns the
distinction between logical and descriptive signs, and the related
distinction between *logical and factual truth*”. Now (in
1942), he says, he would make these distinctions “primarily in
semantics, not in syntax”. (See the supplement on
Semantics
for more details.)

In Part V of the *Logical Syntax*, just as in the final part of
the *Aufbau*, Carnap draws philosophical lessons from the more
or less technical construction efforts of the earlier chapters. The
main burden of this section is to introduce and deploy, in a variety
of contexts, the distinction between the “formal” and the
“material” modes of speech in the philosophical
metalanguage (for which two candidates, Languages I and II, had been
developed in sections I–III of the book). Though, as we have
seen, the distinction between syntax and semantics was not entirely
clear yet in the *Logical Syntax*, the goal of developing a
philosophical or scientific meta-language referring solely to
linguistic artifacts in an object language (leaving reference to any
actual *things* or *processes* in the
“world” to the scientific object language itself) is
clearly spelled out and developed astonishingly far, considering how
recently the Hilbert-Gödel-Tarski efforts at formalization had
begun. And corresponding to this goal was the over-arching message of
Part V that in order to be scientifically unobjectionable, the
“logic of science” (i.e., meta-linguistic discussion of
all knowledge, Carnap’s projected replacement for philosophy)
had to be purely formal, i.e., in line with Carnap’s
inferentialism, could not refer to any objects or processes directly,
but only to linguistic artifacts in an object language. Philosophy,
that is, insofar as it could aspire to survive this radical
transformation, must be restricted to the “formal mode of
speech”. Of course Carnap recognized that as a practical matter,
the “material mode of speech” (in which objects and
processes in the “world” *are* referred to) was
unavoidable, but he goes into some detail to show how, in such cases,
translatability into the formal mode of speech remains the critical
distinction between usable meta-scientific (philosophical) language in
the sense of logical syntax and (what he regards as) metaphysical
pseudo-language.

The Wittgensteinian criterion of “meaning” for scientific
sentences, so recently made notorious in Carnap’s papers of the
early 1930s, especially his critique of Heidegger (Carnap 1932a), was
now dropped, therefore, and instead of a demarcation between
“meaningful” scientific sentences and
“meaningless” metaphysical ones, there was now a
distinction between scientifically acceptable sentences in a
meta-language that could be translated into purely formal
(syntactical) terms and those that could not. (Observation sentences
and purely observational generalizations in the scientific object
language remained genuinely meaningful in a yet-to-be-determined sense
that became the principal bone of contention in the so-called
“protocol sentence debate”.) Of course this resolute
rejection of “meaning” (in a metalanguage), in any sense
that would go beyond syntax, would last only for about a year after
the book’s publication, and soon Carnap was speaking of
“meaning” in a semantic sense of the term. Many of
Carnap’s readers at the time were very confused and disconcerted
by this apparent about-turn, and failed to understand that the
reintroduction of “meaning” in the purely schematic
Tarskian sense that Carnap embraced from about 1935 was not a
*return* to anything, least of all a return to
“meaning” in the original sense of Russell’s
multiple-relations theory or Wittgenstein’s picture theory of
meaning. In the sense of this general motivation, Carnap was not only
a kind of inferentialist during his syntax period, as, e.g., Peregrin
(forthcoming) suggests, but remained resolutely inferentialist through
his entire semantic period—i.e., for the rest of his
career—by taking the meaning of expressions in a formally
constructed object language to be determined jointly by the syntactic,
logical, and semantic *rules* of a constructed metaframework,
and by regarding the choice among such framework for semantics as a
*practical matter* that did not reflect any inflationary
commitment to the existence of abstract semantic entities (as
explained in his “Empiricism, Semantics and Ontology”,
Carnap 1950a, see the supplement on
Tolerance, Metaphysics, and Meta-Ontology).

Since Part V was written in 1932 before Carnap had arrived at the principle of tolerance (which is actually announced not in Part V but in the concluding section of Part I), there is almost no mention of tolerance in Part V, which is the part that of course got most of the attention from philosophers. Carnap had devoted a good deal of Part IV (written in 1933) to illustrations and applications of the principle of tolerance, but that was overlooked. Part V was widely perceived to reflect the basic philosophical substance of the book, and since the criterion of translatability into the formal mode—which dominates Part V—was taken back soon after the book’s publication, many thought the book as a whole could now be safely ignored. The deeper and more lasting lesson of the principle of tolerance was missed. When the principle of tolerance came back into wider philosophical discussion after the publication of Gödel’s critique in 1995 (see the supplement on Tolerance, Metaphysics, and Meta-Ontology), it was still quite a new and revolutionary idea (see the supplement on Tolerance, Metaphysics, and Meta-Ontology for more on this).