# Indicative Conditionals

*First published Wed Aug 8, 2001; substantive revision Sat Aug 29, 2020*

Take a sentence in the indicative mood, suitable for making a statement: “We’ll be home by ten”, “Tom cooked the dinner”. Attach a conditional clause to it, and you have a sentence which makes a conditional statement: “We’ll be home by ten if the train is on time”, “If Mary didn’t cook the dinner, Tom cooked it”. A conditional sentence “If \(A, C\)” or “\(C\) if \(A\)” thus has two contained sentences or sentence-like clauses. \(A\) is called the antecedent, \(C\) the consequent. If you understand \(A\) and \(C\), and you have mastered the conditional construction (as we all do at an early age), you understand “If \(A, C\)”. What does “if” mean? Consulting the dictionary yields “on condition that; provided that; supposing that”. These are adequate synonyms. But we want more than synonyms. A theory of conditionals aims to give an account of the conditional construction which explains when conditional judgements are acceptable, which inferences involving conditionals are good inferences, and why this linguistic construction is so important. Despite intensive work of great ingenuity, this remains a highly controversial subject.

- 1. Introduction
- 2. Truth Conditions for Indicative Conditionals
- 3. The Suppositional Theory
- 4. Truth Conditions Revisited
- 5. Compounds of Conditionals: Problems for the Suppositional Theory
- 6. Other Conditional Speech Acts and Propositional Attitudes
- Bibliography
- Academic Tools
- Other Internet Resources
- Related Entries

## 1. Introduction

First let us delimit our field. The examples with which we began are traditionally called “indicative conditionals”. There are also “subjunctive” or “counterfactual” conditionals like “Tom would have cooked the dinner if Mary had not done so”, “We would have been home by ten if the train had been on time”. Counterfactuals will be the subject of a separate entry, and theories addressing them will not be discussed here. That there is some difference between indicatives and counterfactuals is shown by pairs of examples like “If Oswald didn’t kill Kennedy, someone else did” and “If Oswald hadn’t killed Kennedy, someone else would have”: you can accept the first yet reject the second (Adams (1970)). That there is not a huge difference between them is shown by examples like the following: “Don’t go in there”, I say, “If you go in you will get hurt”. You look sceptical but stay outside, when there is large crash as the roof collapses. “You see”, I say, “if you had gone in you would have got hurt. I told you so.”

It is controversial how best to classify conditionals. According to some theorists, the forward-looking “indicatives” (those with a “will” in the main clause) belong with the “subjunctives” (those with a “would” in the main clause), and not with the other “indicatives”. (See Gibbard (1981, pp. 222–6), Dudman (1984, 1988), Bennett (1988). Bennett (1995) changed his mind. Jackson (1990) defends the traditional view.) The easy transition from typical “wills” to “woulds” is indeed a datum to be explained. Still, straightforward statements about the past, present or future, to which a conditional clause is attached — the traditional class of indicative conditionals — do (in my view) constitute a single semantic kind. The theories to be discussed do not fare better or worse when restricted to a particular subspecies.

As well as conditional statements, there are conditional commands, promises, offers, questions, etc.. As well as conditional beliefs, there are conditional desires, hopes, fears, etc.. Our focus will be on conditional statements and what they express — conditional beliefs; but we will consider which of the theories we have examined extends most naturally to these other kinds of conditional.

Three kinds of theory will be discussed. In §2 we compare truth-functional and non-truth-functional accounts of the truth conditions of conditionals. In §3 we examine what is called the suppositional theory: that conditional judgements essentially involve suppositions. On development, it appears to be incompatible with construing conditionals as statements with truth conditions. §4 looks at some responses from advocates of truth conditions. In §5 we consider the problem for the suppositional theory of complex sentences with conditional parts. In §6 we consider a wider variety of conditional speech acts and propositional attitudes.

Where we need to distinguish between different interpretations, we write “\(A \supset B\)” for the truth-functional conditional, “\(A \rightarrow B\)” for a non-truth-functional conditional and “\(A \Rightarrow B\)” for the conditional as interpreted by the suppositional theory; and for brevity we call protagonists of the three theories Hook, Arrow and Supp, respectively. We use “\({\sim}\)” for negation.

## 2. Truth Conditions for Indicative Conditionals

### 2.1 Two Kinds of Truth Condition

The generally most fruitful, and time-honoured, approach to specifying the meaning of a complex sentence in terms of the meanings of its parts, is to specify the truth conditions of the complex sentence, in terms of the truth conditions of its parts. A semantics of this kind yields an account of the validity of arguments involving the complex sentence, given the conception of validity as necessary preservation of truth. Throughout this section we assume that this approach to conditionals is correct. Let \(A\) and \(B\) be two sentences such as “Ann is in Paris” and “Bob is in Paris”. Our question will be: are the truth conditions of “If \(A, B\)” of the simple, extensional, truth-functional kind, like those of “\(A\) and \(B\)”, “\(A \text{ or } B\)” and “It is not the case that \(A\)”? That is, do the truth values of \(A\) and of \(B\) determine the truth value of “If \(A, B\)”? Or are they non-truth-functional, like those of “\(A\) because \(B\)”, “\(A\) before \(B\)”, “It is possible that \(A\)”? That is, are they such that the truth values of \(A\) and \(B\) may, in some cases, leave open the truth value of “If \(A, B\)”?

The truth-functional theory of the conditional was integral to
Frege’s new logic (1879). It was taken up enthusiastically by
Russell (who called it “material implication”),
Wittgenstein in the *Tractatus*, and the logical positivists,
and it is now found in every logic text. It is the first theory of
conditionals which students encounter. Typically, it does not strike
students as *obviously* correct. It is logic’s first
surprise. Yet, as the textbooks testify, it does a creditable job in
many circumstances. And it has many defenders. It is a strikingly
simple theory: “If \(A, B\)” is false when \(A\) is true
and \(B\) is false. In all other cases, “If \(A, B\)” is
true. It is thus equivalent to “\({\sim}(A \amp{\sim}B)\)”
and to “\({\sim}A\) or \(B\)”. “\(A \supset
B\)” has, by stipulation, these truth conditions.

*If* “if” is truth-functional, this is the right
truth function to assign to it: of the sixteen possible
truth-functions of \(A\) and \(B\), it is the only serious candidate.
First, it is uncontroversial that when \(A\) is true and \(B\) is
false, “If \(A, B\)” is false. A basic rule of inference
is modus ponens: from “If \(A, B\)” and \(A\), we can
infer \(B\). If it were possible to have \(A\) true, \(B\) false and
“If \(A, B\)” true, this inference would be invalid.
Second, it is uncontroversial that “If \(A, B\)” is
*sometimes* true when \(A\) and \(B\) are respectively (true,
true), or (false, true), or (false, false). “If it’s a
square, it has four sides”, said of an unseen geometric figure,
is true, whether the figure is a square, a rectangle or a triangle.
Assuming truth-functionality — that the truth value of the
conditional is *determined* by the truth values of its parts
— it follows that a conditional is *always* true when its
components have these combinations of truth values.

Non-truth-functional accounts agree that “If \(A, B\)” is false when \(A\) is true and \(B\) is false; and they agree that the conditional is sometimes true for the other three combinations of truth-values for the components; but they deny that the conditional is always true in each of these three cases. Some agree with the truth-functionalist that when \(A\) and \(B\) are both true, “If \(A, B\)” must be true. Some do not, demanding a further relation between the facts that \(A\) and that \(B\) (see Read (1995)). This dispute need not concern us, as the arguments which follow depend only on the feature on which non-truth-functionalists agree: that when \(A\) is false, “If \(A, B\)” may be either true or false. For instance, I say (*) “If you touch that wire, you will get an electric shock”. You don’t touch it. Was my remark true or false? According to the non-truth-functionalist, it depends on whether the wire is live or dead, on whether you are insulated, and so forth. Robert Stalnaker’s (1968) account is of this type: consider a possible situation in which you touch the wire, and which otherwise differs minimally from the actual situation. (*) is true (false) according to whether or not you get a shock in that possible situation.

Let \(A\) and \(B\) be two logically independent propositions. The four lines below represent the four incompatible logical possibilities for the truth values of \(A\) and \(B\). “If \(A, B\)”, “If \({\sim}A, B\)” and “If \(A, {\sim}B\)” are interpreted truth-functionally in columns (i)–(iii), and non-truth-functionally (when their antecedents are false) in columns (iv)–(vi). The non-truth-functional interpretation we write “\(A \rightarrow B\)”. “T/F” means both truth values are possible for the corresponding assignment of truth values to \(A\) and \(B\). For instance, line 4, column (iv), represents two possibilities for \(A, B\), If \(A, B\), (F, F, T) and (F, F, F).

(i) | (ii) | (iii) | |||

\(A\) | \(B\) | \(A \supset B\) | \({\sim}A \supset B\) | \(A \supset{\sim}B\) | |

1. | T | T | T | T | F |

2. | T | F | F | T | T |

3. | F | T | T | T | T |

4. | F | F | T | F | T |

(iv) | (v) | (vi) | |||

\(A\) | \(B\) | \(A \rightarrow B\) | \({\sim}A \rightarrow B\) | \(A \rightarrow{\sim}B\) | |

1. | T | T | T | T/F | F |

2. | T | F | F | T/F | T |

3. | F | T | T/F | T | T/F |

4. | F | F | T/F | F | T/F |

### 2.2 Arguments for Truth-Functionality

The main argument points to the fact that minimal knowledge that the truth-functional truth condition is satisfied is enough for knowledge that if \(A, B\). Suppose there are two balls in a bag, labelled \(x\) and \(y\). All you know about their colour is that at least one of them is red. That’s enough to know that if \(x\) isn’t red, \(y\) is red. Or: all you know is that they are not both red. That’s enough to know that if \(x\) is red, \(y\) is not red.

Suppose you start off with no information about which of the four possible combinations of truth values for \(A\) and \(B\) obtains. You then acquire compelling reason to think that either \(A\) or \(B\) is true. You don’t have any stronger belief about the matter. In particular, you have no firm belief as to whether \(A\) is true or not. You have ruled out line 4. The other possibilities remain open. Then, intuitively, you are justified in inferring that if \({\sim}A, B\). Look at the possibilities for \(A\) and \(B\) on the left. You have eliminated the possibility that both \(A\) and \(B\) are false. So if \(A\) is false, only one possibility remains: \(B\) is true.

The truth-functionalist (call him Hook) gets this right. Look at column (ii). Eliminate line 4 and line 4 only, and you have eliminated the only possibility in which “\({\sim}A \supset B\)” is false. You know enough to conclude that “\({\sim}A \supset B\)” is true.

The non-truth-functionalist (call her Arrow) gets this wrong. Look at column (v). Eliminate line 4 and line 4 only, and some possibility of falsity remains in other cases which have not been ruled out. By eliminating just line 4, you do not thereby eliminate these further possibilities, incompatible with line 4, in which “\({\sim}A \rightarrow B\)” is false.

The same point can be made with negated conjunctions. You discover for sure that \({\sim}(A \amp B)\), but nothing stronger than that. In particular, you don’t know whether \(A\). You rule out line 1, nothing more. You may justifiably infer that if \(A, {\sim}B\). Hook gets this right. In column (iii), if we eliminate line 1, we are left only with cases in which “\(A \supset{\sim}B\)” is true. Arrow gets this wrong. In column (vi), eliminating line 1 leaves open the possibility that “\(A \rightarrow{\sim}B\)” is false.

The same argument renders compelling the thought that if we eliminate
*just* \(A \amp{\sim}B\), nothing stronger, i.e., we
don’t eliminate \(A\), then we have sufficient reason to
conclude that if \(A, B\).

Here is a second argument in favour of Hook, in the style of Natural Deduction. The rule of Conditional Proof (CP) says that if \(Z\) follows from premises \(X\) and \(Y\), then “If \(Y, Z\)” follows from premise \(X\). Now the three premises \({\sim}(A \amp B), A\) and \(B\) entail a contradiction. So, by Reductio Ad Absurdum, from \({\sim}(A \amp B)\) and \(A\), we can conclude \({\sim}B\). So by CP, \({\sim}(A \amp B)\) entails “If \(A, {\sim}B\)”. Substitute “\({\sim}C\)” for \(B\), and we have a proof of “If \(A\), then \({\sim}{\sim}C\)” from “\({\sim}(A \amp{\sim}C)\)”. And provided we also accept Double Negation Elimination, we can derive “If \(A\), then \(C\)” from “\({\sim}(A \amp{\sim}C)\)”.

Conditional Proof seems sound: “From \(X\) and \(Y\), it follows
that \(Z\). So from \(X\) it follows that if \(Y, Z\)”. Yet
*for no reading of “if” which is stronger than the
truth-functional reading is CP valid* — at least this is so
if we treat “&” and “\({\sim}\)” in the
classical way and accept the validity of the inference: (I) \({\sim}(A
\amp{\sim}B)\); \(A\); therefore \(B\). Suppose CP is valid for some
interpretation of “If \(A, B\)”. Apply CP to (I), and we
get \({\sim}(A \amp{\sim}B)\); therefore if \(A, B\), i.e., \(A
\supset B\) entails if \(A, B\).

### 2.3 Arguments Against Truth-Functionality

The best-known objection to the truth-functional account, one of the “paradoxes of material implication”, is that according to Hook, the falsity of \(A\) is sufficient for the truth of “If \(A, B\)”. Look at the last two lines of column (i). In every possible situation in which \(A\) is false, “\(A \supset B\)” is true. Can it be right that the falsity of “She touched the wire” entails the truth of “If she touched the wire she got a shock”?

Hook might respond as follows. How do we test our intuitions about the validity of an inference? The direct way is to imagine that we know for sure that the premise is true, and to consider what we would then think about the conclusion. Now when we know for sure that \({\sim}A\), we have no use for thoughts beginning “If \(A\), …”. When you know for sure that Harry didn’t do it, you don’t go in for “If Harry did it …” thoughts or remarks. In this circumstance conditionals have no role to play, and we have no practice in assessing them. The direct intuitive test is, therefore, silent on whether “If \(A, B\)” follows from \({\sim}A\). If our smoothest, simplest, generally satisfactory theory has the consequence that it does follow, perhaps we should learn to live with that consequence.

There may, of course, be further consequences of this feature of Hook’s theory which jar with intuition. That needs investigating. But, Hook may add, even if we come to the conclusion that “\(\supset\)” does not match perfectly our natural-language “if”, it comes close, and it has the virtues of simplicity and clarity. We have seen that rival theories also have counterintuitive consequences. Natural language is a fluid affair, and we cannot expect our theories to achieve better than approximate fit. Perhaps, in the interests of precision and clarity, in serious reasoning we should replace the elusive “if” with its neat, close relative, \(\supset\) .

This was no doubt Frege’s attitude. Frege’s primary concern was to construct a system of logic, formulated in an idealized language, which was adequate for mathematical reasoning. If “\(A \supset B\)” doesn’t translate perfectly our natural-language “If \(A, B\)”, but plays its intended role, so much the worse for natural language.

For the purpose of doing mathematics, Frege’s judgement was probably correct. The main defects of \(\supset\) don’t show up in mathematics. There are some peculiarities, but as long as we are aware of them, they can be lived with. And arguably, the gain in simplicity and clarity more than offsets the oddities.

The oddities are harder to tolerate when we consider conditional
judgements about empirical matters. The difference is this: in
thinking about the empirical world, we often accept and reject
propositions with degrees of confidence less than certainty. “I
think, but am not sure, that \(A\)” plays no central role in
mathematical thinking. We can, perhaps, ignore as unimportant the use
of indicative conditionals in circumstances in which we are
*certain* that the antecedent is false. But we cannot ignore
our use of conditionals whose antecedent we think is likely to be
false. We use them often, accepting some, rejecting others. “I
think I won’t need to get in touch, but if I do, I shall need a
phone number”, you say as your partner is about to go away; not
“If I do I’ll manage by telepathy”. “I think
John spoke to Mary; if he didn’t he wrote to her”; not
“If he didn’t he shot her”. Hook’s theory has
the unhappy consequence that *all* conditionals with unlikely
antecedents are likely to be true. To think it likely that \({\sim}A\)
is to think it likely that a sufficient condition for the truth of
“\(A \supset B\)” obtains. Take someone who thinks that
the Republicans won’t win the election \(({\sim}R)\), and who
rejects the thought that if they do win, they will double income tax
\((D)\). According to Hook, this person has grossly inconsistent
opinions. For if she thinks it’s likely that \({\sim}R\), she
must think it likely that at least one of the propositions,
\(\{{\sim}R, D\}\) is true. But that is just to think it likely that
\(R \supset D\). (Put the other way round, to reject \(R \supset D\)
is to accept \(R \amp{\sim}D\); for this is the only case in which \(R
\supset D\) is false. How can someone accept \(R \amp{\sim}D\) yet
reject \(R\)?) Not only does Hook’s theory fit badly the
patterns of thought of competent, intelligent people. It cannot be
claimed that we would be better off with \(\supset\). On the contrary,
we would be intellectually disabled: we would not have the power to
discriminate between believable and unbelievable conditionals whose
antecedent we think is likely to be false.

Arrow does not have this problem. Her theory is designed to avoid it, by allowing that “\(A \rightarrow B\)” may be false when \(A\) is false.

The other paradox of material implication is that according to Hook
all conditionals with true consequents are true: from \(B\) it follows
that \(A \supset B\). This is perhaps less obviously unacceptable: if
I’m sure that \(B\), and treat \(A\) as an epistemic
possibility, I must be sure that if \(A, B\). Again the problem
becomes vivid when we consider the case when I’m only nearly
sure, but not quite sure, that \(B\). I think \(B\) *may* be
false, and will be false if certain, in my view unlikely,
circumstances obtain. For example, I think Sue is giving a lecture
right now. I don’t think that if she was seriously injured on
her way to work, she is giving a lecture right now. I reject that
conditional. But on Hook’s account, the conditional is false
only if the consequent is false. I think the consequent is true: I
think a sufficient condition for the truth of the conditional
obtains.

### 2.4 Grice’s Pragmatic Defence of Truth-Functionality

H. P. Grice famously defended the truth-functional account, in his William James lectures, “Logic and Conversation”, delivered in 1967 (see Grice (1989); see also Thomson (1990)). There are many ways of speaking the truth yet misleading your audience, given the standard to which you are expected to conform in conversational exchange. One way is to say something weaker than some other relevant thing you are in a position to say. Consider disjunctions. I am asked where John is. I am sure that he is in the pub, and know that he never goes near libraries. Inclined to be unhelpful but not wishing to lie, I say “He is either in the pub or in the library”. My hearer naturally assumes that this is the most precise information I am in a position to give, and also concludes from the truth (let us assume) that I told him “If he’s not in the pub he’s in the library”. The conditional, like the disjunction, according to Grice, is true if he’s in the pub, but misleadingly asserted on that ground.

Another example, from David Lewis (1976, p. 143): “You won’t eat those and live”, I say of some wholesome and delicious mushrooms—knowing that you will now leave them alone, deferring to my expertise. I told no lie—for indeed you don’t eat them—but of course I misled you.

Grice drew attention, then, to situations in which a person is
*justified in believing* a proposition, which would
nevertheless be an unreasonable thing for the person to *say*,
in normal circumstances. His lesson was salutary and important. He is
right, I think, about disjunctions and negated conjunctions. Believing
that John is in the pub, I can’t consistently
*disbelieve* “He’s either in the pub or the
library”; if I have any epistemic attitude to this proposition,
it should be one of belief, however inappropriate for me to assert it.
Similarly for “You won’t eat those and live” when I
know you won’t eat them. But it is implausible that the
difficulties with the truth-functional conditional can be explained
away in terms of what is an inappropriate conversational remark. They
arise at the level of belief. Thinking that John is in the pub, I may
without irrationality disbelieve “If he’s not in the pub
he’s in the library”. Thinking you won’t eat the
mushrooms, I may without irrationality reject “If you eat them
you will die”. As facts about the norms to which people defer,
these claims can be tested. A good enough test is to take a
co-operative person, who understands that you are merely interested in
her opinions about the propositions you put to her, as opposed to what
would be a reasonable remark to make, and note which conditionals she
assents to. Are we really to brand as illogical someone who dissents
from both “The Republicans will win” and “If the
Republicans win, income tax will double”?

The Gricean phenomenon is a real one. On anyone’s account of conditionals, there will be circumstances when a conditional is justifiably believed, but is liable to mislead if stated. For instance, I believe that the match will be cancelled, because all the players have ’flu. I believe that whether or not it rains, the match will be cancelled: if it rains, the match will be cancelled, and if it doesn’t rain, the match will be cancelled. Someone asks me whether the match will go ahead. I say, “If it rains, the match will be cancelled”. I say something I believe, but I mislead my audience — why should I say that, when I think it will be cancelled whether or not it rains? This does not demonstrate that Hook is correct. Although I believe that the match will be cancelled, I don’t believe that if all the players make a very speedy recovery, the match will be cancelled.

### 2.5 Compounds of Conditionals: Problems for Hook and Arrow

\({\sim}(A \supset B)\) is equivalent to \(A \amp{\sim}B\). Intuitively, you may safely say, of an unseen geometric figure, “It’s not the case that if it’s a pentagon, it has six sides”. But by Hook’s lights, you may well be wrong; for it may not be a pentagon, and in that case it is true that if it’s a pentagon, it has six sides.

Another example, due to Gibbard (1981, pp. 235–6): of a glass that had been held a foot above the floor, you say (having left the scene) “If it broke if it was dropped, it was fragile”. Intuitively this seems reasonable. But by Hook’s lights, if the glass was not dropped, and was not fragile, the conditional has a true (conditional) antecedent and false consequent, and is hence false.

Grice’s strategy was to explain why we don’t assert certain conditionals which (by Hook’s lights) we have reason to believe true. In the above two cases, the problem is reversed: there are compounds of conditionals which we confidently assert and accept which, by Hook’s lights, we do not have reason to believe true.

Another bad result is that according to Hook, the following is a valid argument:

If \(A \amp B, C\); therefore, either, if \(A, C\), or, if \(B, C\).

Even in mathematics, this looks wrong. Said of an unseen plane figure: “If it’s a triangle and it’s equiangular, it’s equilateral; therefore, either, if it’s a triangle it’s equilateral, or, if it’s equiangular it’s equilateral”. (I owe this example to Alberto Mura.)

The above examples are not a problem for Arrow. But other cases of embedded conditionals count in the opposite direction. Here are two sentence forms which are, intuitively, equivalent:

- If \((A \amp B), C\).
- If \(A\), then if \(B, C\).

(Following Vann McGee (1989) I’ll call the principle that (i) and (ii) are equivalent the Import-Export Principle, or “Import-Export” for short.) Try any example: “If Mary comes then if John doesn’t have to leave early we will play Bridge”; “If Mary comes and John doesn’t have to leave early we will play Bridge”. “If they were outside and it rained, they got wet”; “If they were outside, then if it rained, they got wet”. For Hook, Import-Export holds. (Exercise: do a truth table, or construct a proof.) Gibbard (1981, pp. 234–5) has proved that for no conditional with truth conditions stronger than \(\supset\) does Import-Export hold. Assume Import-Export holds for some reading of “if”. The key to the proof is to consider the formula

- If \((A \supset B)\) then (if \(A,B)\).

By Import-Export, (1) is equivalent to

- If \(((A \supset B) \amp A))\) then \(B\).

The antecedent of (2) entails its consequent. So (2) is a logical truth. So by Import-Export, (1) is a logical truth. On any reading of “if”, “if \(A, B\)” entails \((A \supset B)\). So (1) entails

- \((A \supset B) \supset\) (if \(A, B)\).

So (3) is a logical truth. That is, there is no possible situation in which its antecedent \((A \supset B)\) is true and its consequent (if \(A, B)\) is false. That is, \((A \supset B)\) entails “If \(A, B\)”.

Neither kind of truth condition has proved entirely satisfactory. We still have to consider Jackson’s defence of Hook, and Stalnaker’s response to the problem about non-truth-functional truth conditions raised in §2.2. These are deferred to §4, because they depend on the considerations developed in §3.

## 3. The Suppositional Theory

### 3.1 Conditional Belief and Conditional Probability

Let us put truth conditions aside for a while, and ask what it is to believe, or to be more or less certain, that \(B\) if \(A\) — that John cooked the dinner if Mary didn’t, that you will recover if you have the operation, and so forth. How do you make such a judgement? You suppose (assume, hypothesise) that \(A\), and make a hypothetical judgement about \(B\), under the supposition that \(A\), in the light of your other beliefs. Frank Ramsey put it like this:

If two people are arguing “If \(p\), will \(q\)?” and are both in doubt as to \(p\), they are adding \(p\) hypothetically to their stock of knowledge, and arguing on that basis about \(q\); … they are fixing their degrees of belief in \(q\) given \(p\) (1929, p. 247).

A suppositional theory was advanced by J. L. Mackie (1973, chapter 4). See also David Barnett (2006). Peter Gärdenfors’s work (1986, 1988) could also come under this heading. But the most fruitful development of the idea (in my view) takes seriously the last part of the above quote from Ramsey, and emphasises the fact that conditionals can be accepted with different degrees of closeness to certainty. Ernest Adams (1965, 1966, 1975) has developed such a theory.

When we are neither certain that \(B\) nor certain that \({\sim}B\), there remains a range of epistemic attitudes we may have to \(B\): we may be nearly certain that \(B\), think \(B\) more likely than not, etc.. Similarly, we may be certain, nearly certain, etc. that \(B\) given the supposition that \(A\). Make the idealizing assumption that degrees of closeness to certainty can be quantified: 100% certain, 90% certain, etc.; and we can turn to probability theory for what Ramsey called the “logic of partial belief”. There we find a well-established, indispensable concept, “the conditional probability of \(B\) given \(A\)”. It is to this notion that Ramsey refers by the phrase “degrees of belief in \(q\) given \(p\)”.

It is, at first sight, rather curious that the best-developed and most illuminating suppositional theory should place emphasis on uncertain conditional judgements. If we knew the truth conditions of conditionals, we would handle uncertainty about conditionals in terms of a general theory of what it is to be uncertain of the truth of a proposition. But there is no consensus about the truth conditions of conditionals. It happens that when we turn to the theory of uncertain judgements, we find a concept of conditionality in use. It is worth seeing what we can learn from it.

The notion of conditional probability entered probability theory at an early stage because it was needed to compute the probability of a conjunction. Thomas Bayes (1763) wrote:

The probability that two … events will both happen is … the probability of the first [multiplied by] the probability of the secondon the supposition thatthe first happens [my emphasis].

A simple example: a ball is picked at random. 70% of the balls are red (so the probability that a red ball is picked is 70%). 60% of the red balls have a black spot (so the probability that a ball with a black spot is picked, on the supposition that a red ball is picked, is 60%). The probability that a red ball with a black spot is picked is 60% of 70%, i.e. 42%.

Ramsey, arguing that “degrees of belief” should conform to probability theory, stated the same “fundamental law of partial belief”:

Degree of belief in \((p\) and \(q) =\) degree of belief in \(p \times\) degree of belief in \(q\) given \(p\). (1926, p. 77)

For example, you are about 50% certain that the test will be on conditionals, and about 80% certain that you will pass, on the supposition that it is on conditionals. So you are about 40% certain that the test will be on conditionals and you will pass.

Accepting Ramsey’s suggestion that “if”, “given that”, “on the supposition that” come to the same thing, writing “\(\mathbf{p}(B)\)” for “degree of belief in \(B\)”, and “\(\mathbf{p}_A (B)\)” for “degree of belief in \(B\) given \(A\)”, and rearranging the basic law, we have:

\[ \mathbf{p}(B \text{ if } A) = \mathbf{p}_A (B) = \frac{\mathbf{p}(A \amp B)}{\mathbf{p}(A)}, \text{ provided } \mathbf{p}(A) \text{ is not } 0. \]Call a set of mutually exclusive and jointly exhaustive propositions a partition. The lines of a truth table constitute a partition. One’s degrees of belief in the members of a partition, idealized as precise, should sum to 100%. That is all there is to the claim that degrees of belief should have the structure of probabilities. Consider a partition of the form \(\{A \amp B, A \amp{\sim}B, {\sim}A\}\). Suppose someone X thinks it 50% likely that \({\sim}A\) (hence 50% likely that \(A), 40\)% likely that \(A \amp B\), and 10% likely that \(A \amp{\sim}B\). Think of this distribution as displayed geometrically, as follows. Draw a long narrow horizontal rectangle. Divide it in half by a vertical line. Write “\({\sim}A\)” in the right-hand half. Divide the left-hand half with another vertical line, in the ratio 4:1, with the larger part on the left. Write “\(A \amp B\)” and “\(A \amp{\sim}B\)” in the larger and smaller cells respectively.

\(A \amp B\) | \(A \amp{\sim}B\) | \({\sim}A\) |

(Note that as \(\{A \amp B, A \amp{\sim}B, {\sim}A\}\) and \(\{A, {\sim}A\}\) are both partitions, it follows that \(\mathbf{p}(A) = \mathbf{p}(A \amp B) + \mathbf{p}(A \amp{\sim}B)\).)

How does X evaluate “If \(A, B\)”? She assumes that \(A\), that is, hypothetically eliminates \({\sim}A\). In the part of the partition that remains, in which \(A\) is true, \(B\) is four times as likely as \({\sim}B\); that is, on the assumption that \(A\), it is four to one that \(B: \mathbf{p}(B\) if \(A)\) is 80%, \(\mathbf{p}({\sim}B\) if \(A)\) is 20%. Equivalently, as \(A \amp B\) is four times as likely as \(A \amp{\sim}B, \mathbf{p}(B\) if \(A)\) is 4/5, or 80%. Equivalently, \(\mathbf{p}(A \amp B)\) is 4/5 of \(\mathbf{p}(A)\). In non-numerical terms: you believe that if \(A, B\) to the extent that you think that \(A \amp B\) is nearly as likely as \(A\); or, to the extent that you think \(A \amp B\) is much more likely than \(A \amp{\sim}B\). If you think \(A \amp B\) is as likely as \(A\), you are certain that if \(A, B\). In this case, your \(\mathbf{p}(A \amp{\sim}B) = 0\).

Go back to the truth table. You are wondering whether if \(A, B\). Assume \(A\). That is, ignore lines 3 and 4 in which \(A\) is false. Ask yourself about the relative probabilities of lines 1 and 2. Suppose you think line 1 is about 100 times more likely than line 2. Then you think it is about 100 to 1 that \(B\) if \(A\).

Note: these thought-experiments can only be performed when
\(\mathbf{p}(A)\) is not 0. On this approach, indicative conditionals
only have a role when the thinker takes \(A\) to be an epistemic
possibility. If you take yourself to know for sure that Ann is in
Paris, you don’t go in for “If Ann is not in Paris
…” thoughts (though of course you can think “If Ann
had not been in Paris …”). In conversation, you can
pretend to take something as an epistemic possibility, temporarily, to
comply with the epistemic state of the hearer. When playing the
sceptic, there are not many limits on what you *can*, at a
pinch, take as an epistemic possibility – as not already ruled
out. But there are some limits, as Descartes found. Is there a
conditional thought that begins “If I don’t exist now
…”?

On Hook’s account, to be close to certain that if \(A, B\) is to give a high value to \(\mathbf{p}(A \supset B)\). How does \(\mathbf{p}(A \supset B)\) compare with \(\mathbf{p}_A (B)\)? In two special cases, they are equal: first, if \(\mathbf{p}(A \amp{\sim}B) = 0\) (and \(\mathbf{p}(A)\) is not 0), \(\mathbf{p}(A \supset B) = \mathbf{p}_A (B) = 1\) (i.e. 100%). Second, if \(\mathbf{p}(A) = 100\)%, \(\mathbf{p}(A \supset B) = \mathbf{p}_A (B) = \mathbf{p}(B)\). In all other cases, \(\mathbf{p}(A \supset B)\) is greater than \(\mathbf{p}_A (B)\). To see this we need to compare \(\mathbf{p}(A \amp{\sim}B)\) and \(\mathbf{p}(A \amp{\sim}B)/\mathbf{p}(A)\). Consider again the partition \(\{A \amp B, A \amp{\sim}B, {\sim}A\}. \mathbf{p}(A \amp{\sim}B)\) is a smaller proportion of the whole space than it is of the \(A\)-part — the part of the space in which \(A\) is true — except in the special cases in which \(\mathbf{p}(A \amp{\sim}B) = 0\), or \(\mathbf{p}({\sim}A) = 0\). So, except in these special cases, \(\mathbf{p}_A ({\sim}B)\) is greater than \(\mathbf{p}(A \amp{\sim}B)\). Now \(\mathbf{p}(A \supset B) = \mathbf{p}({\sim}(A \amp{\sim}B))\); and \(\mathbf{p}(A \amp{\sim}B) + \mathbf{p}({\sim}(A \amp{\sim}B)) = 1\). Also \(\mathbf{p}_A (B) + \mathbf{p}_A ({\sim}B) = 1\). So from \(\mathbf{p}_A ({\sim}B) \gt \mathbf{p}(A \amp{\sim}B)\) it follows that \(\mathbf{p}(A \supset B) \gt \mathbf{p}_A (B)\).

Hook and the suppositional theorist (call her Supp) come spectacularly apart when \(\mathbf{p}({\sim}A)\) is high and \(\mathbf{p}(A \amp B)\) is much smaller than \(\mathbf{p}(A \amp{\sim}B)\). Let \(\mathbf{p}({\sim}A) = 90\)%, \(\mathbf{p}(A \amp B) = 1\)%, \(\mathbf{p}(A \amp{\sim}B) = 9\)%. \(\mathbf{p}_A (B) = 10\)%. \(\mathbf{p}(A \supset B) = 91\)%. For instance, I am 90% certain that Sue won’t be offered the job \(({\sim}O)\), and think it only 10% likely that she will decline the offer \((D)\) if it is made, that is \(\mathbf{p}_O (D) = 10\)%. \(\mathbf{p}(O \supset D) = \mathbf{p}({\sim}O \text{ or } (O \amp D)) = 91\)%.

Now let us compare Hook, Arrow, and Supp with respect to two questions raised in §2.

- Question 1. You are certain that \({\sim}(A \amp{\sim}B)\), but
not certain that \({\sim}A\). Should you be certain that if \(A, B\)?
Hook: yes. Because “\(A \supset B\)” is true whenever \(A \amp{\sim}B\) is false.

Supp: yes. Because \(A \amp B\) is as likely as \(A. \mathbf{p}_A (B) = 1\).

Arrow: no, not necessarily. For “\(A \rightarrow B\)” may be false when \(A \amp{\sim}B\) is false. With just the information that \(A \amp{\sim}B\) is false, I should not be certain that if \(A, B\).

- Question 2. If you think it likely that \({\sim}A\), might you
still think it unlikely that if \(A, B\)?
Hook: no. “\(A \supset B\)” is true in all the possible situations in which \({\sim}A\) is true. If I think it likely that \({\sim}A\), I think it likely that a sufficient condition for the truth of “\(A \supset B\)” obtains. I must, therefore, think it likely that if \(A, B\).

Supp: yes. We had an example above. That most of my probability goes to \({\sim}A\) leaves open the question whether or not \(A \amp B\) is more probable than \(A \amp{\sim}B\). If \(\mathbf{p}(A \amp{\sim}B)\) is greater than \(\mathbf{p}(A \amp B)\), I think it’s unlikely that if \(A, B\). That’s compatible with thinking it likely that \({\sim}A\).

Arrow: yes. “If \(A, B\)” may be false when \(A\) is false. And I might well think it likely that that possibility obtains, i.e. unlikely that “If \(A, B\)” is true.

Supp has squared the circle: she gets the intuitively right answer to both questions. In this she differs from both Hook and Arrow. Supp’s way of assessing conditionals is incompatible with the truth-functional way (they answer Question 2 differently); and incompatible with stronger-than-truth-functional truth conditions (they answer Question 1 differently). It follows that Supp’s way of assessing conditionals is incompatible with the claim that conditionals have truth conditions of any kind. \(\mathbf{p}_A (B)\) does not measure the probability of the truth of any proposition. Suppose it did measure the probability of the truth of some proposition \(A*B\). Either \(A*B\) is entailed by “\(A \supset B\)”, or it is not. If it is, it is true whenever \({\sim}A\) is true, and hence cannot be improbable when \({\sim}A\) is probable. That is, it cannot agree with Supp in its answer to Question 2. If \(A*B\) is not entailed by “\(A \supset B\)”, it may be false when \({\sim}(A \amp{\sim}B)\) is true, and hence certainty that \({\sim}(A \amp{\sim}B)\) (in the absence of certainty that \({\sim}A)\) is insufficient for certainty that \(A*B\); it cannot agree with Supp in its answer to Question 1.

To make the point in a slightly different way, let me adopt the
following as an expository, heuristic device, a harmless fiction.
Imagine a partition as carved into a large finite number of
equally-probable chunks, such that the propositions with which we are
concerned are true in an exact number of them. The probability of any
proposition is the proportion of chunks in which it is true. The
probability of \(B\) on the supposition that \(A\) is the proportion
*of the* \(A\)*-chunks* (the chunks in which \(A\) is
true) which are \(B\)-chunks. With some misgivings, I succumb to the
temptation to call these chunks “worlds”: they are equally
probable, mutually incompatible and jointly exhaustive epistemic
possibilities, enough of them for the propositions with which we are
concerned to be true, or false, at each world. The heuristic value is
that judgements of probability and conditional probability then
translate into statements about proportions.

Although Supp and Hook give the same answer to Question 1, their
reasons are different. Supp answers “yes” *not*
because a proposition, \(A*B\), is true whenever \(A \amp{\sim}B\) is
false; but because \(B\) is true in all the “worlds” which
matter for the assessment of “If \(A, B\)”: the
\(A\)-worlds. Although Supp and Arrow give the same answer to Question
2, their reasons are different. Supp answers “yes”, not
because a proposition \(A*B\) may be false when \(A\) is false; but
because the fact that most worlds are \({\sim}A\)-worlds is irrelevant
to whether most *of the* \(A\)*-worlds* are
\(B\)-worlds. To judge that \(B\) is true *on the supposition
that* \(A\) is true, it turns out, is not to judge that
something-or-other, \(A*B\), is true.

By a different argument, David Lewis (1976) was the first to prove this remarkable result: there is no proposition \(A*B\) such that, in all probability distributions, \(\mathbf{p}(A*B) = \mathbf{p}_A (B)\). Conditional probability does not measure the probability of the truth of any proposition. If a conditional has truth conditions, one should believe it to the extent that one thinks it is probably true. If Supp is correct, that one believes “If \(A, B\)” to the extent that one thinks it probable that \(B\) on the supposition that \(A\), then this is not equivalent to believing some proposition to be probably true. Hence, it appears, if Supp is right, conditionals shouldn’t be construed as having truth conditions at all. A conditional judgement involves two propositions, which play different roles. One is the content of a supposition. The other is the content of a judgement made under that supposition. They do not combine to yield a single proposition which is judged to be likely to be true just when the second is judged likely to be true on the supposition of the first.

(Lewis called his proofs “triviality results”, because the conclusions are avoided only in a trivial probability space which is incapable of giving positive probability to more than two incompatible propositions—for instance, is incapable of giving positive probability to \(A \amp B, A \amp{\sim}B\), and \({\sim}A\). The name is widely used in the literature. For recent examples see Khoo and Mandelkern (2019) and Charlow (2019).)

Note: ways of restoring truth conditions, compatible with Supp’s thesis, are considered in §5.

### 3.2 Validity

Ernest Adams, in two articles (1965, 1966) and a subsequent book (1975), gave a theory of the validity of arguments involving conditionals as construed by Supp. He taught us something important about classically valid arguments as well: that they are, in a special sense to be made precise, probability-preserving. This property can be generalized to apply to arguments with conditionals. The valid ones are those which, in the special sense, preserve probability or conditional probability.

First consider classically valid (that is, necessarily truth-preserving) arguments which don’t involve conditionals. We use them in arguing from contingent premises about which we are often less than completely certain. The question arises: how certain can we be of the conclusion of the argument, given that we think, but are not sure, that the premises are true? Call the improbability of a statement one minus its probability. Adams showed this: if (and only if) an argument is valid, then in no probability distribution does the improbability of its conclusion exceed the sum of the improbabilities of its premises. Call this the Probability Preservation Principle (PPP).

The proof of PPP rests on the Partition Principle — that the probabilities of the members of a partition sum to 100% — nothing else, beyond the fact that if \(A\) entails \(B, \mathbf{p}(A \amp{\sim}B) = 0\). Here are three consequences:

- if \(A\) entails \(B, \mathbf{p}(A) \le \mathbf{p}(B)\)
- \(\mathbf{p}(A \text{ or } B) = \mathbf{p}(A) + \mathbf{p}(B) - \mathbf{p}(A \amp B) \le \mathbf{p}(A) + \mathbf{p}(B)\)
- For all \(n, \mathbf{p}(A_1\) or … or \(A_n) \le \mathbf{p}(A_1) + \cdots + \mathbf{p}(A_n)\)

Suppose \(A_1, \ldots, A_n\) entail \(B\). Then \({\sim}B\) entails \({\sim}A_1\) or … or \({\sim}A_n\). Therefore \(\mathbf{p}({\sim}B) \le \mathbf{p}({\sim}A_1) + \cdots + \mathbf{p}({\sim}A_n)\): the improbability of the conclusion of a valid argument cannot exceed the sum of the improbabilities of the premises.

The result is useful to know: if you have two premises of which you are at least 99% certain, they entitle you to be at least 98% certain of a conclusion validly drawn from them. Of course, if you have 100 premises each at least 99% certain, your conclusion may have zero probability. That is the lesson of the “Lottery Paradox”. Still, Adams’s result vindicates deductive reasoning from uncertain premises, provided that they are not too uncertain, and there are not too many of them.

So far, we have a very useful consequence of the classical notion of
validity. Now Adams extends this consequence to arguments involving
conditionals. Take a language with “and”,
“or”, “not” and “if” — but
with “if” occurring only as the main connective in a
sentence. (We put aside compounds of conditionals.) Take any argument
formulated in this language. Consider any probability function over
the sentences of this argument which assigns non-zero probability to
the antecedents of all conditionals — that is, any assignment of
numbers to the non-conditional sentences which conforms to the
Partition Principle, and to the conditional sentences which conforms
to Supp’s thesis: \(\mathbf{p}(B\) if \(A) = \mathbf{p}_A (B) =
\mathbf{p}(A \amp B)/\mathbf{p}(A)\). Let the improbability of the
conditional “If \(A, B\)” be \(1 - \mathbf{p}_A (B)\).
*Define* a valid argument as one such that there is no
probability function in which the improbability of the conclusion
exceeds the sum of the improbabilities of the premises. And a nice
logic emerges, which is now well known. It is the same as
Stalnaker’s logic over this domain (see §4.1). There are
rules of proof, a decision procedure, consistency and completeness can
be proved. See Adams (1998 and 1975).

I shall write the conditional which satisfies Adams’s criterion of validity “\(A \Rightarrow B\)”. We have already seen that in all distributions, \(\mathbf{p}_A (B) \le \mathbf{p}(A \supset B)\). Therefore, \(A \Rightarrow B\) entails \(A \supset B\): it cannot be the case that the former is more probable than the latter. Call a non-conditional sentence a factual sentence. If an argument has a factual conclusion, and is classically valid with the conditional interpreted as \(\supset\), it is valid with the conditional interpreted as the stronger \(\Rightarrow\). The following patterns of inference are therefore valid:

\[\begin{align} A; A \Rightarrow B; &\text{ so } B \text{ (modus ponens)} \\ A \Rightarrow B; {\sim}B; &\text{ so } {\sim}A \text{ (modus tollens)} \\ A \text{ or } B; A \Rightarrow C; B \Rightarrow C; &\text{ so } C. \end{align}\]We cannot consistently have their premises highly probable and their conclusion highly improbable.

Arguments with conditional conclusions, however, may be valid when the conditional is interpreted as the weaker \(A \supset B\), but invalid when it is interpreted as the stronger \(A \Rightarrow B\). Here are some examples.

\[ B; \text{ so } A \Rightarrow B. \]I can consistently be close to certain that Sue is lecturing right now, while thinking it highly unlikely that if she had a heart attack on her way to work, she is lecturing just now.

\[ {\sim}A; \text{ so } A \Rightarrow B. \]You can consistently be close to certain that the Republicans won’t win, while thinking it highly unlikely that if they win they will double income tax.

\[ {\sim}(A \amp B); \text{ so } A \Rightarrow{\sim}B \]I can consistently be close to certain that it’s not the case that I will be hit by a bomb and injured today, while thinking it highly unlikely that if I am hit by a bomb, I won’t be injured.

\[ A \text{ or } B; \text{ so } {\sim}A \Rightarrow B. \]As I think it is very likely to rain tomorrow, I think it’s very likely to be true that it will rain or snow tomorrow. But I think it’s very unlikely that if it doesn’t rain, it will snow.

\[ A \Rightarrow B; \text{ so } (C \amp A) \Rightarrow B \text{ (strengthening of the antecedent).} \]I can think it’s highly likely that if you strike the match, it will light; but highly unlikely that if you dip it in water and strike it, it will light.

Strengthening is a special case of transitivity, in which the missing premise is a tautology: if \(C \amp A\) then \(A\); if \(A, B\); so if \(C \amp A, B\). So transitivity also fails:

\[ A \Rightarrow B; B \Rightarrow C; \text{ so } A \Rightarrow C. \]Adams gave this example (1966): I can think it highly likely that if Jones is elected, Brown will resign immediately afterwards; I can also think it highly likely that if Brown dies before the election, Jones will be elected; but I do not think it at all likely that if Brown dies before the election, Brown will resign immediately after the election!

We saw in §2.2 that Conditional Proof (CP) is invalid for any
conditional stronger than \(\supset\). It is invalid in Adams’s
logic. For instance, “\({\sim}(A \amp B)\); \(A\); so
\({\sim}B\)” is valid. It contains no conditionals. Any
necessarily truth-preserving argument satisfies PPP. If I’m
close to certain that I won’t be hit by a bomb and injured,
*and close to certain that I will be hit by a bomb*, then I
must be close to certain that I won’t be injured. But, as we
saw, “\({\sim}(A \amp B)\); so \(A \Rightarrow{\sim}B\)”
is invalid. Yet we can get the latter from the former by CP.

Why does CP fail on this conception of conditionals? After all,
Supp’s idea is to treat the antecedent of a conditional as an
*assumption*. What is the difference between the roles of a
premise, and of the antecedent of a conditional in the conclusion?

The antecedent of the conditional is indeed treated as an assumption. On this conception of validity, the premises are not, primarily, treated as assumptions. We also make inferences from beliefs, including beliefs which are less than certain. Indeed, it is not immediately clear what it would be to treat a conditional, construed according to Supp, as an assumption: to assume something, as ordinarily understood, is to assume that it is true; and conditionals are not being construed as ordinary statement of fact. But we could approximate the idea of taking the premises as assumptions, by treating them, hypothetically, as certainties. Treating the premises thus would be to require of a valid argument that it preserve certainty: that there must be no probability distributions in which all the premises (conditional or otherwise) are assigned probability 1 and the conclusion is assigned probability less than 1. Call this the certainty-preservation principle (CPP).

The conception of validity we have been using (PPP) takes as central the fact that premises may be accepted with degrees of confidence less than certainty. Now, anything which satisfies PPP satisfies CPP. And for argument involving only factual propositions, the converse is also true: the same class of arguments necessarily preserves truth, necessarily preserves certainty and necessarily preserves probability in the sense of PPP. But arguments involving conditionals can satisfy CPP without satisfying PPP. The invalid argument forms above do preserve certainty: if you assign probability 1 to the premises, then you are constrained to assign probability 1 to the conclusion (in all probability distributions in which the antecedent of any conditional gets non-zero probability). But they do not preserve high probability. They do not satisfy PPP. If at least one premise falls short of certainty by however small an amount, the conclusion can plummet to zero.

The logico-mathematical fact behind this is the difference in logical powers between “All” and “Almost all”. If all \(A\)-worlds are \(B\)-worlds (and there are some \(C \amp A\)-worlds) then all \(C \amp A\)-worlds are \(B\)-worlds. But we can have: almost all \(A\)-worlds are \(B\)-worlds but no \(C \amp A\)-world is a \(B\)-world. If all \(A\)-worlds are \(B\)-worlds and all \(B\)-worlds are \(C\)-worlds, then all \(A\)-worlds are \(C\)-worlds. But we can have: all \(A\)-worlds are \(B\)-worlds, almost all \(B\)-worlds are \(C\)-worlds, yet no \(A\)-world is a \(C\)-world; just as we can have, all kiwis are birds, almost all birds fly, but no kiwi flies.

Someone might react as follows: “All I want of a valid argument is that it preserve certainty. I’m not bothered if an argument can have premises close to certain and a conclusion far from certain, as long as the conclusion is certain when the premises are certain”.

We *could* use the word “valid” in such a way that
an argument is valid provided it preserves certainty. If our interest
in logic is confined to its application to mathematics or other a
priori matters, that is fine. Further, when our arguments do not
contain conditionals, if we have certainty-preservation,
probability-preservation comes free. But if we use conditionals when
arguing about contingent matters, then great caution will be required.
Unless we are 100% certain of the premises, the arguments above which
are invalid on Adams’s criterion guarantee nothing about what
you are entitled to think about the conclusion. The line between 100%
certainty and something very close is hard to make out: it’s not
clear how you tell which side of it you are on. The epistemically
cautious might admit that they are never, or only very rarely, 100%
certain of contingent conditionals. So it would be useful to have
another category of argument, the “super-valid”, which
preserves high probability as well as certainty. Adams has shown us
which arguments (on Supp’s reading of “if”) are
super-valid.

Continuing to restrict our attention to the case where the antecedent has non-zero probability, this argument-form preserves certainty: A\(\supset\)B; so A\(\Rightarrow\)B. The converse inference is uncontroversial. So if we were just concerned with certainty preservation, Hook and Supp would be equivalent. But they are far from equivalent for uncertain beliefs: the former can be arbitrarily close to 1 while the latter is 0.

## 4. Truth Conditions Revisited

### 4.1 Nearest Possible Worlds

Adams’s theory of validity emerged in the mid-1960s. “Nearest possible worlds” theories were not yet in evidence. Nor was Lewis’s result that conditional probabilities are not probabilities of the truth of a proposition. (Adams expressed scepticism about truth conditions for conditionals, but the question was still open.) Stalnaker’s (1968) semantics for conditionals was an attempt to provide truth conditions which were compatible with Ramsey’s and Adams’s thesis about conditional belief. (See also Stalnaker (1970), where the probabilistic aspects of his proposal are developed.) That is, he sought truth conditions for a proposition \(A\gt B\) (his notation) such that \(\mathbf{p}(A\gt B)\) must equal \(\mathbf{p}_A (B)\):

Now that we have found an answer to the question, “How do we decide whether or not we believe a conditional statement?” [Ramsey’s and Adams’s answer] the problem is to make the transition from belief conditions to truth conditions; … . The concept of apossible worldis just what we need to make the transition, since a possible world is the ontological analogue of a stock of hypothetical beliefs. The following … is a first approximation to the account I shall propose: Consider a possible world in which \(A\) is true and otherwise differs minimally from the actual world.“If \(A\), then \(B\)” is true (false) just in case \(B\) is true (false) in that possible world. (1968, pp. 33–4)

If an argument is necessarily truth-preserving, the improbability of its conclusion cannot exceed the sum of the improbabilities of the premises. The latter was the criterion Adams used in constructing his logic. So Stalnaker’s logic for conditionals must agree with Adams’s over their common domain. And it does. The argument forms we showed to be invalid in Adams’s logic (§3.2) are invalid on Stalnaker’s semantics. For instance, the following is possible: in the nearest possible world in which you strike the match, it lights; in the nearest world in which you dip the match in water and strike it, it doesn’t light. So Strengthening fails. (By “nearest world in which …” I mean the possible world which is minimally different from the actual world in which … .)

Conditional Proof fails for Stalnaker’s semantics. “\(A\) or \(B\); \({\sim}A\); so \(B\)” is of course valid. But (*) “\(A\) or \(B\), therefore \({\sim}A\gt B\)” is not: it can be true that Ann or Mary cooked the dinner (for Ann cooked it); yet false that in the nearest world to the actual world in which Ann did not cook it, Mary cooked it.

Stalnaker (1975) argued that although (*) is invalid, it is nevertheless a “reasonable inference” when “\(A\) or \(B\)” is assertable, that is, in a context in which \({\sim}A \amp{\sim}B\) has been ruled out but \({\sim}A \amp B\) and \(A \amp{\sim}B\) remain open possibilities.

Stalnaker’s semantics uses a “selection function”, F, which selects, for any proposition \(A\) and any world \(w\), a world, \(w'\), the nearest (most similar) world to \(w\) at which \(A\) is true. “If \(A, B\)” is true at \(w\) iff \(B\) is true at F\((A, w)\), i.e. at \(w'\). “If \(A, B\)” is true simpliciter iff \(B\) is true at the nearest \(A\)-world to the actual world. (However, we do not know which world is the actual world—there are many candidates compatible with our knowledge. To be sure that if \(A, B\), we need to be sure that whichever world \(w\) is a candidate for actuality, \(B\) is true at the nearest \(A\)-world to \(w\).) If \(A\) is true, the nearest \(A\)-world to the actual world is the actual world itself, so in this case “If \(A, B\)” is true iff \(B\) is also true. The selection function does substantive work only when \(A\) is false.

Stalnaker’s theory is intended to apply to counterfactuals and indicative conditionals alike, but in the case of indicative conditionals, he claims, the selection function is subject to a pragmatic constraint, set in the framework of the dynamics of conversation. At any stage in a conversation, many things are taken for granted by speaker and hearer, i.e. many possibilities are taken as already ruled out. The remaining possibilities are live. He calls the set of worlds which are not ruled out — the live possibilities — the context set. For indicative conditionals, antecedents are typically live possibilities, and we focus on that case. The pragmatic constraint for indicative conditionals says that if the antecedent \(A\) is compatible with the context set (i.e. true at some worlds in the context set) then for any world \(w\) in the context set, the nearest \(A\)-world to \(w\) — i.e. the world picked out by the selection function — is also a member of the context set. Roughly, if \(A\) is a live possibility (i.e. not already ruled out), then for any world \(w\) which is a live possibility, the nearest \(A\)-world to \(w\) is also a live possibility. Or: things which are taken to be epistemically possible count as closer to actuality than things which are not.

The proposition expressed by “If \(A, B\)” is the set of worlds \(w\) such that the nearest \(A\)-world to \(w\) is a \(B\)-world. The ordering of worlds, by the pragmatic constraint, depends on the conversational setting. As different possibilities are live in different conversational settings, a different proposition may be expressed by “If \(A, B\)” in different conversational settings. Thus, the truth-conditions of conditionals are context-dependent, depending on which possibilities the speaker and hearer have ruled out.

Let us transpose this to the one-person case: I am talking to myself, i.e. thinking — considering whether if \(A, B\). The context set is the set of worlds compatible with what I take for granted, i.e. the set of worlds not ruled out, i.e. the set of worlds which are epistemically possible for me. Let \(A\) be epistemically possible for me. Then the pragmatic constraint requires that for any world in the context set, the nearest \(A\)-world to it is also in the context set. Provided you and I have different bodies of information, the proposition I am considering when I consider whether if \(A, B\) may well differ from the proposition you would express in the same words: the constraints on nearness differ; worlds which are near for me may not be near for you.

This enables Stalnaker to avoid the argument against non-truth-functional truth conditions given in §2.2. The argument was as follows. There are six incompatible logically possible combinations of truth values for \(A, B\) and \({\sim}A\gt B\). We start off with no firm beliefs about which obtains. Now we eliminate just \({\sim}A \amp{\sim}B\), i.e. establish \(A\) or \(B\). That leaves five remaining possibilities, including two in which “\({\sim}A\gt B\)” is false. So we can’t be certain that \({\sim}A\gt B\) (whereas, intuitively, one can be certain of the conditional in these circumstances). Stalnaker replies: we can’t, indeed, be certain that the proposition we were wondering about earlier is true. But we are now in a new context: \({\sim}A \amp{\sim}B\)-worlds have been ruled out (but \({\sim}A \amp B\)-worlds remain). We now express a different proposition by “\({\sim}A\gt B\)”, with different truth conditions, governed by a new nearness relation. As all our live \({\sim}A\)-worlds are \(B\)-worlds (none are \({\sim}B\)-worlds), we know that the new proposition is true.

This sensitivity of the proposition expressed by “If \(A, B\)” to what is taken for granted by speaker and hearer, or to the epistemic state of the thinker, is somewhat unnatural. One usually distinguishes between the content of what is said and the different epistemic attitudes one may take to that same content. Someone conjectures that if Ann isn’t home, Bob is. We are entirely agnostic about this. Then we discover that at least one of them is at home (nothing stronger). We now accept the conditional. It seems more natural to say that we now have a different attitude to the same conditional thought, that \(B\) on the supposition that \({\sim}A\). It does not seem that the content of our conditional thought has changed. And if there are conditional propositions, it seems more natural to say that we now take to be true what we were previously wondering about. There does not seem to be independent motivation for thinking the content of the proposition has changed.

Also, Stalnaker’s argument is restricted to the special case where we take the \({\sim}A \amp{\sim}B\)-possibilities to be ruled out. Consider a case when, starting out agnostic, we become close to certain, but not quite certain, that \(A\) or \(B\) — say we become about 95% certain that \(A\) or \(B\), and are about 50% certain that \(A\). According to Supp, we are entitled to be quite close to certain that if \({\sim}A, B\) — 90% certain in fact. (If \(\mathbf{p}(A \text{ or } B) = 95\)% and \(\mathbf{p}(A) = 50\)%, then \(\mathbf{p}({\sim}A \amp B) = 45\)%. Now \(\mathbf{p}({\sim}A \amp{\sim}B) = 5\)%. So, on the assumption that \({\sim}A\), it’s 45:5, or 9:1, that \(B\).) In this case, no additional possibilities have been ruled out. There are \({\sim}A \amp{\sim}B\)-worlds as well as \({\sim}A \amp B\)-worlds which are permissible candidates for being nearest. Stalnaker has not told us why we should think it likely, in this case, that the nearest \({\sim}A\)-world is a \(B\)-world.

Uncertain conditional judgements create difficulties for all
propositional theories. As we have seen, it is easy to construct
probabilistic counterexamples to Hook’s theory; and it is easy
to do so for the variant of Stalnaker’s theory according to
which “If \(A, B\)” is true iff \(B\) is true at
*all* nearest \(A\)-worlds (as Lewis (1973) holds for
counterfactuals). (It is very close to certain that if you toss the
coin ten times, you will get at least one head; but it is certainly
false that the consequent is true at *all* nearest
antecedent-worlds.) It is rather harder for Stalnaker’s theory,
because nearness is so volatile, and also because it is not fully
specified. But here is a putative counterexample: the short straws.
(An example of this type I learned from James Studd.)

You are to pick a straw from a collection of 100 straws. From the angle you see them—end on—they all look the same; and they are the same, except for length. 90 are of length 10 cm, 1 is 11 cm, and 9 are 20 cm. Consider this conditional, about the straw that will be picked:

(*) If it’s over 10 cm, it’s less than 15 cm.

Intuitively, (*) is 10% likely: of those over 10 cm, one is under 15 cm and nine are not. But on Stalnaker’s theory, (*) appears to be 91% likely: it’s 90% likely that it is not over 10 cm, in which case, in the world most similar to the actual world in which it is over 10 cm, it is 11 cm, i.e. less than 15 cm. And we add another 1% for the case in which it is 11 cm, hence under 15 cm.

(The point is simpler for the counterfactual: “If it had been over 10 cm, it would have been less than 15 cm”: judging by similarity to the actual world, this seems true; but intuitively it is only 10% likely.)

The example casts doubt on whether any notion of similarity, or minimal difference from the actual world, is the right notion for understanding conditionals, as opposed to taking a probability distribution over the various possible antecedent worlds.

There is also the question, for Stalnaker, of the uniqueness assumption—that there is a unique closest antecedent-world. Stalnaker (1981, pp. 87–91) discusses this, and proposes to use the machinery of supervaluations when there is no unique nearest world: the conditional is true iff true whichever of the candidates for nearest the selection function selects, false iff false for all such selections, otherwise it is indeterminate—neither true nor false. As the uniqueness assumption often fails, a great many conditionals will just get the verdict indeterminate. For instance, I am considering whether, (*) if I pick a red ball, it will have a black spot. 90% of the red balls have black spots. Merely to be told that (*) is indeterminate, is less helpful than being told it is 90% likely.

Does making the proposition expressed by the conditional context-dependent escape Lewis’s result that a conditional probability is not the probability of the truth of any proposition? Lewis showed that there is no proposition \(A*B\) such that in every belief state \(\mathbf{p}(A*B) = \mathbf{p}_A (B)\). He did not rule out that in every belief state there is some proposition or other, \(A*B\), such that \(\mathbf{p}(A*B) = \mathbf{p}_A (B)\). However, in the wake of Lewis, Stalnaker himself proved a stronger result, for his conditional connective: the equation \(\mathbf{p}(A\gt B) = \mathbf{p}_A (B)\) cannot hold for all propositions \(A, B\) in a single belief state. If it holds for \(A\) and \(B\), we can find two other propositions, \(C\) and D (truth-functional compounds of \(A, B\) and \(A\gt B)\) for which, demonstrably, it does not hold. (See Stalnaker’s letter to van Fraassen published in van Fraassen (1976, pp. 303–4), Gibbard (1981, pp. 219–20), and Edgington (1995, pp. 276–8).

It was Gibbard (1981, pp. 231–4) who showed just how sensitive to epistemic situations Stalnaker’s truth conditions would be. Later (1984, ch. 6), reacting to Gibbard, Stalnaker seemed more ambivalent about whether conditional judgements express propositions. But he still takes his original theory to be a serious candidate (Stalnaker 2005, 2019), and this remains an influential theory. His work has inspired others to develop related theories: context-dependent theories are currently popular (see below, §4.3); the fact that Stalnaker kept the probabilistic considerations aside in his 1968 paper led others to develop the Ramsey test for all-or-nothing beliefs—see e.g. Gärdenfors (1986); and another close relative of Stalnaker’s semantics, due to Richard Bradley (2012), is discussed below in §5.

### 4.2 A Special Assertability Condition

Frank Jackson holds that “If \(A, B\)” has the truth conditions of “\(A \supset B\)”, i.e. “\({\sim}A\) or \(B\)”; but it is part of its meaning that it is governed by a special rule of assertability. “If” is assimilated to words like “but”, “nevertheless” and “even”. “\(A\) but \(B\)” has the same truth conditions as “\(A\) and \(B\)”, yet they differ in meaning: “but” is used to signal a contrast between \(A\) and \(B\). When \(A\) and \(B\) are true and the contrast is lacking, “\(A\) but \(B\)” is true but inappropriate. Likewise, “Even John can understand this proof” is true when John can understand this proof, but inappropriate when John is a world-class logician.

According to Jackson, in asserting “If \(A, B\)” the speaker expresses his belief that \(A \supset B\), and also indicates that this belief is “robust” with respect to the antecedent \(A\). In Jackson’s early work (1979, 1980) “robustness” was explained thus: the speaker would not abandon his belief that \(A \supset B\) if he were to learn that \(A\). This, it was claimed, amounted to the speaker’s having a high probability for \(A \supset B\) given \(A\), i.e. for \(({\sim}A\) or \(B)\) given \(A\), which is just to have a high probability for \(B\) given \(A\). Thus, assertability goes by conditional probability. Robustness was meant to ensure that an assertable conditional is fit for modus ponens. Robustness is not satisfied if you believe \(A \supset B\) solely on the grounds that \({\sim}A\). Then, if you discover that \(A\), you will abandon your belief in \(A \supset B\) rather than conclude that \(B\).

Jackson came to realise, however, that there are assertable conditionals which one would not continue to believe if one learned the antecedent. I say “If Reagan worked for the KGB, I’ll never find out” (Lewis’s example (1986, p. 155)). My conditional probability for consequent given antecedent is high. But if I were to discover that the antecedent is true, I would abandon the conditional belief, rather than conclude that I will never find out that the antecedent is true. So, in Jackson’s later work (1987), robustness with respect to \(A\) is simply defined as \(\mathbf{p}_A (A \supset B)\) being high, which is trivially equivalent to \(\mathbf{p}_A (B)\) being high. In most cases, though, the earlier explanation will hold good.

What do we need the truth-functional truth conditions for? Do they explain the meaning of compounds of conditionals? According to Jackson, they do not (1987, p. 129). We know what “\(A \supset B\)” means, as a constituent in complex sentences. But “\(A \supset B\)” does not mean the same as “If \(A, B\)”. The latter has a special assertability condition. And his theory has no implications about what, if anything, “if \(A, B\)” means when it occurs, unasserted, as a constituent in a longer sentence.

(Here his analogy with “but” etc. fails. “But” can occur in unasserted clauses: “Either he arrived on time but didn’t wait for us, or he never arrived at all” (see Woods (1997, p. 61)). It also occurs in questions and commands: “Shut the door but leave the window open”. “Does anyone want eggs but no ham?”. “But” means “and in contrast”. Its meaning is not given by an “assertability condition”.)

Do the truth-functional truth conditions explain the validity of arguments involving conditionals? Not in a way that accords well with intuition, we have seen. Jackson claims that our intuitions are at fault here: we confuse preservation of truth and preservation of assertability (1987, pp. 50–1).

Nor is there any direct evidence for Jackson’s theory. Nobody
who thinks the Republicans won’t win treats “If the
Republicans win, they will double income tax” as inappropriate
but probably true, in the same category as “Even Gödel
understood truth-functional logic”. Jackson is aware of this. He
seems to advocate an error theory of conditionals: ordinary linguistic
behaviour fits the false theory that there is a proposition \(A*B\)
such that \(\mathbf{p}(A*B) = \mathbf{p}_A (B)\) (1987, pp.
39–40). If this is his view, he cannot hold that his own theory
is a psychologically accurate account of what people do when they use
conditionals. Perhaps it is an account of how we *should* use
conditionals, and would if we were free from error: we *should*
accept that “If the Republicans win they will double income
tax” is probably true when it is probable that the Republicans
won’t win. Would we gain anything from following this
prescription? It is hard to see that we would: we would deprive
ourselves of the ability to discriminate between believable and
unbelievable conditionals whose antecedents we think false.

For Jackson’s more recent thoughts on conditionals see his postscript (1998, pp. 51–54). See also Edgington (2009) and Jackson’s reply (2009, pp. 463–6).

### 4.3 Restrictors and the Strict Conditional

Angelika Kratzer’s work on conditionals has been very
influential in linguistics, and also in philosophy. Her articles have
appeared, reworked, as a book, *Modals and Conditionals*
(2012). Kratzer’s inspiration comes from a paper by David Lewis,
“Adverbs of Quantification” (1975). Lewis’s paper is
about the analysis of sentences containing adverbs such as
*always*, *never*, *usually*, *often*,
*seldom* …, sentences such as “The fog usually
lifts before noon here” and “Caesar seldom awoke before
dawn”. After considering and rejecting some alternatives, Lewis
introduces “restriction by if-clauses”: he proposes that
there is a use of if-clauses whose function is to restrict the range
of cases to which the operator or quantifier applies. First paraphrase
the sentences: “Usually if there is fog here, it lifts before
noon.” “Seldom if Caesar awoke, it was before dawn.”
(Lewis’s target sentences do not have “if” in their
surface structure, but they could have had: the theory also applies to
sentences like “Usually, if Mary visits, she brings her
dog”.) The “if” restricts the “usually”
to the occurrences of fog here, or of Mary’s visits, and the
“seldom” to Caesar’s awakenings. These sentences are
not to be construed as applying an adverb to a conditional
proposition. The adverb applies to the main clause, its scope
restricted by the if-clause. Thus Lewis:

[T]heifof our restrictive if-clauses should not be regarded as a sentence connective. It has no meaning apart from the adverb it restricts. Theifinalways if…,sometimes if…, and the rest is on a par with the non-connectiveandinbetween … and …, with the non-connectiveorinwhether … or …, or with the non-connectiveifinthe probability that … if. It serves merely to mark an argument-place in a polyadic construction. (Lewis 1975 reprinted in Lewis 1998 pp. 14–15)

Lewis’s final example is particularly interesting, especially because this paper was written at much the same time as his proof that conditional probabilities are not to be construed as probabilities of conditional propositions.

Lewis has three different accounts of “if”: he follows Jackson in claiming that the “if” of indicative conditionals is the truth-functional “if”, with a special rule of assertability (see Lewis 1986 pp. 152–6); there is his famous account of the “if” of counterfactual conditionals (Lewis 1973); and there is this use of “if” as a restrictor.

Kratzer’s idea is that this last account of “if” as a restrictor should be applied to all conditionals. Consider first conditionals which contain a modal term: “If it’s not in the kitchen it must be in the bathroom/might be in the bathroom/is probably in the bathroom”. By analogy with Lewis, she argues that these are not to be construed as attaching a modal term to a conditional proposition; rather, they are to be construed as attaching a modal term to the main clause, the scope of the modal term being restricted by the conditional clause.

But what of a simple conditional which does not contain a modal operator, such as “If it’s not in the kitchen it is in the bathroom” — what Kratzer calls the “bare conditional”? Here is her famous remark:

The history of the conditional is the history of a syntactic mistake. There is no two-placeif … thenconnective in the logical forms of natural languages.If-clauses are devices for restricting the domains of operators.Bare conditionals have unpronounced modal operators[my emphasis]. EpistemicMUSTis one option. (Kratzer (1986), quoted from Kratzer (2012) p. 106)

There is much in common between the restrictor-view of conditionals and the suppositional view. A supposition also restricts one’s claim to the case in which the antecedent is true. The strength of your conditional belief is measured by how probable you judge the consequent, on the assumption that the antecedent is satisfied; and this is not the same as thinking a conditional proposition is probably true. Recall Lewis’s remark about “the probability that … if”. Kratzer’s treatment of modal conditionals may be seen as a generalization to other modalities of this treatment of “Probably, if \(A, C\)”.

However, Kratzer’s treatment of the “bare conditional” is controversial: at the level of semantic structure, there really are no such things — apparent bare conditionals contain an “unpronounced modal operator”. If the modal operator is an epistemic “must”, as she suggests, bare conditionals are a species of strict conditional — something like “all live \(A\)-possibilities are \(C\)-possibilities”.

This proposal has difficulty handling the fact that one may adopt epistemic attitudes to a conditional of varying degrees of closeness to certainty. I may be close to certain, but not completely certain, that Jane will accept if she is offered the job, that if I have the operation I will be cured, etc. Not all the relevant \(A\)-possibilities are \(C\)-possibilities. On this proposal, in these circumstances the conditionals are clearly, definitely false, and should be completely rejected, and hence not something one should be close to certain of. This point holds for any kind of strict conditional — any kind of “must”. Stalnaker (1981 p. 100) made essentially the same point, about counterfactuals, comparing his view with Lewis’s. On a strict-conditional account, the following exchange should be in order:

A: Will Jane accept if she is offered the job?

B: No, it is certainly not the case that she will accept if offered the job [for not all offer-possibilities are accept-possibilities]. But she might well accept if she is offered the job.

B’s remark sounds contradictory.

Stalnaker (ibid.) attributes to Thomasson the closely related point:

A: Will Jane accept if she is offered the job?

B: I believe so, but she might not.

Although B’s reply seems sensible, it is defective on the strict-conditional proposal: not all offer-possibilities are accept-possibilities. The conditional is clearly false. One should not believe something which one judges to be clearly false.

Kratzer will reply that “I believe Jane will accept if she offers the job” introduces a different modality: restricting attention to the offer-possibilities, I believe (but am not certain) that she accepts. Nevertheless, she cannot allow that one can take different epistemic attitudes to the same conditional thought. In this respect her view differs from the Ramsey–Adams approach, as well as the propositional view.

Nor would it do to make the unpronounced modal operator in bare conditionals “probably”; for one can be certain that it is probable that if \(A, C\), without being certain that if \(A, C\). This point is made in more detail by Edgington (1995, pp. 292–3). Thus, while the restrictor view has some plausibility, its treatment of the “bare conditional” as a modalised proposition is problematic.

Other philosophers have also defended the view that indicative conditionals are context-dependent strict conditionals, without adopting Kratzer’s restrictor view. According to Anthony Gillies (2009), a context determines a set of possibilities compatible with the relevant information in the context. “If \(A, C\)” is true at a context iff all relevant \(A\)-possibilities are \(C\)-possibilities, false otherwise. William Lycan (2001), similarly, claims that “If \(A, C\)” is true iff all real and relevant \(A\)-events are \(C\)-events. Context-dependent strict conditionals are also defended by Daniel Rothschild (2013, 2015). The difficulty mentioned above remains: on these accounts, a conditional may be certainly false, yet probable.

### 4.4 Heuristics and Semantics

I shall discuss only briefly a recently published book by Timothy
Williamson, *Suppose and Tell* (2020). Williamson accepts that
the suppositional procedure—suppose the antecedent, and on that
basis come to a judgement about the consequent—is our
fundamental, primary method of conditional judgement, an essential
part of our cognitive equipment. As uncertainty is often involved, he
accepts that it is appropriate to theorize about this process in terms
of conditional probabilities. This is what he calls the
*heuristics* of conditionals (not to be confused with
semantics). Heuristics are part of our cognitive and psychological
apparatus, “fast and frugal”, immensely useful and
valuable, but typically imperfect. In this case, they lead to subtle
logical problems, he argues (ch. 3), broadly of the same kind as
Lewis’s triviality results—indeed, to inconsistencies. An
assessment of these arguments will have to wait for another occasion.
Nevertheless, he claims, they are useful and valuable for our everyday
conditional thinking.

Also, he argues, this primary heuristic is sometimes at odds with a secondary heuristic—acquiring conditional beliefs by testimony. Often this is unproblematic, but, as Gibbard (1981) showed, two people with different background knowledge can flawlessly come to opposite judgements about whether if \(A, B\). They then convey their judgements to a third person, who trusts them, but who cannot accept both judgements, using the suppositional procedure.

Here is Gibbard’s example: two henchmen, Zack and Jack, observe a poker game, between Sly Pete and Mr Stone. Zack sees Stone’s hand, and signals its contents to Pete. He knows that Pete won’t call unless he has the winning hand. Jack sees both hands, and sees that Pete does not have the winning hand. The room is cleared. Outside, Zack hands a note to the boss which says “If Pete called, he won”. Jack hands a note to the boss which says “If Pete called, he lost”. Boss trusts them both, and concludes that Pete did not call. But Boss cannot simply take over both conditionals as suppositional judgements on the supposition that Pete called: if one gets a high value, the other gets a low value. (Nor can Boss think that in the nearest world in which Pete called, he lost and he won.) Williamson has several variants of examples of this structure. (As some have pointed out, Gibbard’s example is perhaps not perfectly symmetric, as Jack’s judgement might seem the most securely based; but plenty of perfectly symmetric examples have since been given.)

The truth-functional, material conditional turns out to be useful
here. The suppositional conditional entails the truth-functional
conditional. Zack is committed to “Pete called \(\supset\) Pete
won”, i.e., either Pete didn’t call, or he won. Jack is
committed to “Pete called \(\supset\) Pete lost”, i.e.,
either Pete didn’t call, or he lost. From both, it
straightforwardly follows that Pete didn’t call. The
truth-functional conditional is the strongest *proposition*
which gets transmitted by conditional testimony. Testimony, at its
best, concerns the transmission of facts; and we can always resort to
the truth-functional conditional as a fact that gets transmitted by a
reliable conditional statement, when problems arise from the differing
background knowledge of our informants (as suppositionalists can
agree).

This is one of the reasons why Williamson argues that the
*semantics* of the conditional is best treated as the truth
function. The semantics is not something which every speaker knows, or
is readily available to them. We do not learn to use “if”
via the truth table. And we know that no semantic theory of the
conditional is *obviously* correct! The probabilities generated
by the semantics are typically higher, and never lower than the
probabilities generated by our basic suppositional procedure for
assessing conditionals. Nevertheless, he argues, the truth-functional
semantics does the best job of rationalizing our overall practice.

Williamson gives other examples of useful but imperfect heuristics. One concerns vagueness, and the so-called “tolerance principles”, such as “If \(n\) seconds after noon is noonish, \(n+1\) seconds after noon is noonish”. That is a useful rule of thumb, though not all of its instances can be true. For the epistemicist, one instance is false, but we don’t know which. On other views, all are at least very close to clearly true, but not all are clearly true. Another example is the problem the Liar Paradox presents for the principle that it is true that \(P\) if and only if \(P\). In both cases, the exceptions are rare and can normally be overlooked. He also mentions the heuristics involved in perceptual judgements, normally very reliable, which sometimes lead us astray. “Humans predictably resort to fast and frugal heuristics, reliable enough under normal conditions, but not perfectly reliable” he says, (p. 265).

However, in the case of uncertain conditionals, it is hard to accept that the heuristics are “reliable enough under normal conditions”, when combined with the truth-functional semantics. When the conditional is certain, the suppositional procedure and the truth function agree. They also agree in the relatively uninteresting case in which the antecedent is certain. In all other cases, the truth-functional conditional gets a higher value than the suppositional conditional, and the difference between them can be arbitrarily large. Many examples have already been given (see §§2.3, 2.5, 3.1, 3.2). Another simple example: how likely is it that if the die lands an even number, it lands 6? Most people, rightly in my view, will answer 1/3. If the conditional is a material implication, the answer is 2/3: if it lands 1, 3, 5 or 6, the conditional is true. As already mentioned, all conditionals whose antecedents are improbable, are probable as judged by the truth function.

Another example: we are planning a trip in a couple of days, and wondering whether

(*) if it snows the night before, the road will be impassable.

The probability of snow is around 0.5; and we reckon (on the suppositional procedure), it’s around 0.2 that the road will be impassable if it snows. According to the truth function, the conditional gets 0.6. Then, as forecasts are updated, the probability of snow decreases. Nothing else changes. On the truth-functional semantics, the probability of our conditional goes up as the probability of snow goes down: when the probability of snow goes down to 0.25, the probability of (*) is 0.8 on the truth-functional reading, although it remains at 0.2 on the suppositional approach. Williamson says that our suppositional procedure errs “on the side of caution” (p. 104) by generating lower probability values than the truth-functional conditional. It is hard to see why, as the probability of snow decreases, we become more risk-averse, and make larger errors on the side of caution.

## 5. Compounds of Conditionals: Problems for the Suppositional Theory

A common complaint against Supp’s theory is that if conditionals
do not express propositions with truth conditions, we have no account
of the behaviour of compound sentences with conditionals as parts (see
e.g. Lewis (1976, p. 142)). Probability theory is no help: conditional
probabilities never occur inside wider constructions. However, no
theory has an intuitively adequate account of compounds of
conditionals: we saw in §2.4 that there are compounds which Hook
gets wrong; and compounds which Arrow gets wrong. Grice’s and
Jackson’s defences of Hook focus on what more is needed to
justify the *assertion* of a conditional, beyond belief that it
is true. This is no help when it occurs, unasserted, as a constituent
of a longer sentence, as Jackson accepts. And with negations of
conditionals and conditionals in antecedents, we saw, the problem is
reversed: we assert conditionals which we would not believe if we
construed them truth-functionally.

Some followers of Adams have tried to show that when a sentence with a conditional subsentence is intelligible, it can be paraphrased, at least in context, by a sentence without a conditional subsentence. For instance, they read “It’s not the case that if \(A, B\)” as “If \(A\), it’s not the case that \(B\)”, and “If \(A\), then if \(B, C\)” as “If \(A \amp B, C\)”. They also point out that some constructions are rarer, and harder to understand, and more peculiar, than would be expected if conditionals had truth conditions and embedded in a standard way. See Appiah (1985, pp. 205–10), Gibbard (1981, pp. 234–8), Edgington (1995, pp. 280–4), Woods (1997, pp. 58–68 and 120–4); see also Jackson (1987, pp. 127–37). (Note that the Lewis-Kratzer strategy (§4.3) also involves paraphrase, so that conditional propositions are not embedded in adverbs and operators.) But it would be better to have a systematic solution to this problem, and there have several attempts.

The first attempt to construct a theory of compounds of conditionals, compatible with Supp’s thesis, is due to Bruno de Finetti (1936), who, shortly after Ramsey, independently developed a theory of probability as degree of belief, and like Ramsey, saw that conditional probability seemed a good measure of one’s degree of belief in a conditional. To deal with compounds of conditionals, he proposed a three-valued semantics for the conditional—true, false, undefined. “If \(A, B\)” is true if \(A \amp B\), false if \(A \amp{\sim}B\), and lacks a truth value—is undefined—if \({\sim}A\). He called these semantic entities “conditional events” or “tri-events”. The probability of a conditional is not the probability of its truth (which is just the probability of \(A \amp B)\), but the probability of its truth given that it is either true or false, which is just the conditional probability of \(B\) given \(A\). Then de Finetti gave truth tables, which accommodate compounds of conditionals. A conjunction is true iff both conjuncts are true, false iff at least one conjunct is false, otherwise undefined. A disjunction is true iff at least one disjunct is true, false if both disjuncts are false, otherwise undefined. Negation takes true to false, false to true, undefined to undefined. A conditional with a false or undefined antecedent is undefined. And the probability of a compound is also the probability that it is true, given that it is either true or false. For work in this tradition see Milne (1997). See also Belnap (1970) and McDermott (1996).

The idea has a certain appeal. A conditional, if \(A, B\), involves the supposition that \(A\). It tells us nothing about what happens if \(A\) is false. But there are costs. On this account, to believe/assert a conditional is not to believe/assert that it is true. It is no fault in a conditional that it is not true, for it is no fault in a conditional that it has a false antecedent. I say “If you press that button there will be an explosion”. A disaster is avoided, because, fortunately, my remark was not true. One might say the normative dimension of truth has been lost. We have to give up the equivalence between “If \(A, B\)” and “It is true that if \(A, B\)”. Even a necessary conditional such as “If \(A \amp B\), then \(A\)” can fail to be true. Validity cannot be preservation of truth, for if it were, “If \(A, B\); so \(A \amp B\)” would be a valid argument.

Further, some of the results this theory delivers for embedded conditionals are not plausible. Mother says “If it doesn’t rain tomorrow we’ll go to the beach, and if it rains we’ll go to the cinema”. This rightly inspires confident expectations. But on the present theory, as one or the other conditional has a false antecedent, the conjunction cannot be true. Yet one or the other conditional might be false, due to some unlikely contretemps, such as illness, in which case the conjunction is false. So the probability that it is true, given that it is either true or false, is 0. The children are 99% confident that if \({\sim}R, B\), and 99% confident that if \(R, C\), but, on this account, they should be 0% confident that (if \({\sim}R, B)\) & (if \(R, C)\). (McGee (1989) raises this objection to the account.)

A second approach gives “semantic values” to conditionals as follows: \(1 (=\) true) if \(A \amp B\); \(0 (=\) false) if \(A \amp{\sim}B\); \(\mathbf{p}_A (B)\) if \({\sim}A\). See van Fraassen (1976), McGee (1989), Jeffrey (1991), Stalnaker and Jeffrey (1994), Sanfilippo et al. (2020). Thus we have a belief-relative three-valued entity. Its probability is its “expected value”. For instance, I’m to pick a ball from a bag. 50% of the balls are red. 80% of the red balls have black spots. Consider “If I pick a red ball \((R)\) it will have a black spot \((B)\)”. \(\mathbf{p}_R (B) = 80\)%. If \(R \amp B\), the conditional gets semantic value 1, if \(R \amp{\sim}B\), it gets semantic value 0. What does it get if \({\sim}R\)? One way of motivating this approach is to treat it as a refinement of Stalnaker’s truth conditions. Is the nearest \(R\)-world a \(B\)-world or not? Well, if I actually don’t pick a red ball, there isn’t any difference, in nearness to the actual world, between the worlds in which I do; but 80% of them are \(B\)-worlds. Select an \(R\)-world at random; then it’s 80% likely that it is a \(B\)-world. So “If \(R, B\)” gets 80% if \({\sim}R\). You don’t divide the \({\sim}R\)-worlds into those in which “If \(R, B\)” is true and those in which it is false. Instead the conditional gets value 80% in all of them. The expected value of “If \(R, B\)” is

\[\begin{align} (\mathbf{p}(R \amp B) &\times 1) + (\mathbf{p}(R \amp{\sim}B) \times 0) + (\mathbf{p}({\sim}R) \times 0.8)) \\ &= (0.4 \times 1) + (0.1 \times 0) + (0.5 \times 0.8) \\ &= 0.8 \\ &= \mathbf{p}_R (B). \end{align}\]Ways of handling compounds of conditionals have been proposed on the basis of these semantic values.

Some of the difficulties of the former account are avoided. Necessary conditionals like “If \(A \amp B\), then \(A\)” are true—get value 1. Conjunctions of the form (if \(A, B)\) & (if \({\sim}A, C)\) do not all get 0. Indeed, conditionals this form always get the value \(\mathbf{p}_A (B).\mathbf{p}_{{\sim}A}(C)\). (The expected value of the conjunction if \(\mathbf{p}(A \amp B).\mathbf{p}_{{\sim}A}(C) + \mathbf{p}({\sim}A \amp C).\mathbf{p}_A (B)\), which simplifies to \(\mathbf{p}_A (B).\mathbf{p}_{{\sim}A}(C)\).) Indeed, the stronger result holds, that if the two antecedents are incompatible, the value of the conjunction is the product of the two conditional probabilities. So our above example about rain, beach and cinema indeed gets a high value.

However, this result for conjunctions of conditionals gives some implausible results. An example due to Mark Lance (1991) concerns a werewolf, such that it’s 50% likely that it is our area tonight. If it is, it will kill everyone outside. “If John went out, he was killed” gets 0.5. But “If John went out the back door, he was killed, and if John went out the front door, he was killed” gets 0.25 on this proposal, whereas it should still get 0.5. Another example, due to Richard Bradley: I must pick one of two urns, only one of which contains the prize. “If I pick the left urn, I’ll win” gets 0.5. “If I pick the right urn, I’ll win” gets 0.5. On this proposal, “If I pick the left urn I’ll win, and if I pick the right urn, I’ll win” gets 0.25, whereas it surely deserves to get 0.

The flaw in this proposal is that the conditional gets the same value in every possible situation in which the antecedent is false. In our second example, in the “pick left and win” situation, “If pick right, win” deserves 0, not 0.5, despite its false antecedent, and in the “pick left and lose” situation, “If pick right, win” deserves 1, not 0.5. In the werewolf example, in the “goes out front door and is killed” situation, “If back door, killed” deserves 1, not 0.5, despite its false antecedent. This point is made by Bradley (2012), who has a different approach.

Bradley’s account can be seen as a modification of
Stalnaker’s (1968) theory discussed in §4.1: consider a
possible world in which \(A\) is true, and otherwise differs minimally
from the actual world; “If \(A\), then \(B\)” is true just
in case \(B\) is true in that possible world. First modification:
Bradley abandons the notion of similarity, or of minimal difference,
in favour of a probability distribution over the candidate A-worlds.
The example of the short straws in §4.1 shows that this is a good
idea. Second modification: conditionals are not propositions. This is
a suppositional theory. Conditionals involve two propositions which
play different roles, one a supposition, one a judgement within its
scope. They cannot be represented by the set of worlds in which they
are true. Indeed, conditionals are not ingredients of
worlds—they are cross-world entities. Bradley proposes that the
conditional “if \(A, B\)” can be represented by the set of
*pairs* of worlds, \(\langle w_i, w_j\rangle\) such that, if
\(w_i\) is actual, and \(w_j\) is the “nearest”
\(A\)-world, i.e. the world that would be actual if \(A\) were true,
the conditional would be true (because \(B\) is true at \(w_j)\).
Note: “nearest” does not mean “most similar”.
There is no ordering of worlds for similarity. It means the world that
would be actual if \(A\) were true. Often, we do not know which world
that is—hence the probability distribution over candidates.
Sometimes it might even be indeterminate which world that is, but
reflection again on the “short straws” example in
§4.1 shows that the probabilities are still in order.

Two types of uncertainty, Bradley notes, are involved in assessing a conditional—uncertainty about the facts—about which world is actual; and uncertainty about what would be the case if some supposition, which may be false, were true. These combine in a joint probability distribution over the set of ordered pairs.

He accepts centering: if \(A\) is true, the “nearest” \(A\)-world is the actual world, and the conditional is true iff \(B\) is true.

Here is a simple model. There are just three possible worlds: at \(w_1, A\) and \(B\) are true; at \(w_2, A\) is true and \(B\) is false; at \(w_3, A\) is false. These generate the following possibilities for the conditional if \(A, B\).

If \(A, B\) | |||

\(w_1\) | \(A,B\) | \(\langle w_1,w_1\rangle\) | T |

\(w_2\) | \(A,{\sim}B\) | \(\langle w_2,w_2\rangle\) | F |

\(w_3\) | \({\sim}A\) | \(\langle w_3,w_1\rangle\) | T |

\(w_3\) | \({\sim}A\) | \(\langle w_3,w_2\rangle\) | F |

The probabilities of these four lines sum to 1.

The first two lines are the cases in which the antecedent is true, so in those the “nearest” world is the actual world. If on the other hand \(w_3\) is actual, that does not tell us whether the nearest \(A\)-world is \(w_1\), in which case the conditional is true, or \(w_2\), in which case the conditional is false.

The crucial rule governing this non-propositional entity is this: the probability of “if \(A, B\)” given \(A\), is the same as the probability of “if \(A, B\)” given \({\sim}A\); the probability of the conditional is independent of its antecedent. This guarantees that \(\mathbf{p}\)(if \(A, B) = \mathbf{p}_A (B)\).

The non-propositional nature of the conditional is essential here. Suppose we just redescribe the four lines above as four possible worlds, four ways the world might be, in two of which the conditional is true—as Stalnaker did. And suppose we start off thinking each of the four is equally likely. Then we learn \({\sim}(A \amp B)\): the first line goes out. We learn nothing other than that. \(\mathbf{p}_A (B)\) is now 0. But \(\mathbf{p}\)(if \(A, B)\) is not 0: the third line remains a possibility, and we haven’t eliminated that. (Indeed, if probabilities change by conditionalization, the third line now has probability 1/3.) In short, no two contingent propositions are probabilistically independent in all probability distributions. But the conditional—not a proposition—is stipulated to be independent of \(A\). On Bradley’s theory, having learned that \({\sim}(A \amp B), \mathbf{p}_A (B) = \mathbf{p}\)(if \(A, B) = 0\); the third line gets 0; should \(A\) turn out to be false, it’s false that if \(A, B\).

With this machinery, the contents of conjunctions, disjunctions and negations of conditionals are given in the usual way by intersection, union and complements of the contents of the component sentences. When a sentence has two conditionals, with two antecedents, such as those of the form \((A\Rightarrow B) \amp({\sim}A\Rightarrow C)\), their semantics requires not ordered pairs but ordered triples, \(\langle w_i, w_j, w_k\rangle\), such that, if \(w_i\) is actual and \(w_j\) is the nearest \(A\)-world, and wk is the nearest \({\sim}A\)-world, the conditional is true. As it is perfectly proper to give probabiity 0 to the possibility: “I pick right and win, and in the nearest world in which I pick left, I win”, the problem for the previous proposal is avoided.

This is a remarkable achievement. Probability is probability of truth. Validity is necessary preservation of truth, and so Adams’s probabilistic criterion of validity is demonstrable. If B is true/false at all \(A\)-worlds, \(A\Rightarrow B\) is straightforwardly true/false. Plenty of others may be straightforwardly true/false, whether or not we know this. The many uncertain conditionals come out with the right probability—the conditional probability of \(B\) given \(A\). The construction is not easy to work with, but it is a sort of possibility proof—that the embeddings objection can be met. (Bradley also has a suggested approach to conditionals within conditionals, but this has not been worked out in detail.)

It is not ad hoc or unheard-of to claim that some kinds of content cannot be represented by a set of worlds—the set of worlds in which they are true. Some examples: to capture the content of indexical thoughts using “I” and “now”, we need the richer notion of a “centred world”—an ordered triple of a world, and individual and a time (see Lewis 1979). Gibbard (1990) proposes that the content of a normative judgement can be represented by a set of ordered pairs \(\langle w, n\rangle\) where w is a world and n is a set of norms. Moss (2018) argues that the contents of probability judgements are not propositions but sets of probability spaces. And Bacon (2018) argues that the contents of vague thoughts cannot be represented by a set of worlds. (He calls them propositions nevertheless—that is a verbal issue—but they are not propositions in the sense that is relevant here.)

I shall end this section by discussing a notorious example of Vann McGee’s (1985)—a counterexample to modus ponens. Before Reagan’s first election, Reagan was hot favourite, a second Republican, Anderson, was a complete outsider, and Carter was lagging well behind Reagan. Consider first

- If a Republican wins and Reagan does not win, then Anderson will win.

As these are the only two Republicans in the race, (1) is unassailable. Now consider

- If a Republican wins, then if Reagan does not win, Anderson will win.

We read (2) as equivalent to (1), hence also unassailable.

Suppose I’m close to certain (say, 90% certain) that Reagan will win. Hence I am close to certain that

- A Republican will win.

But I don’t believe

- If Reagan does not win, Anderson will win.

I’m less than 1% certain that (4). On the contrary, I believe that if Reagan doesn’t win, Carter will win. As these opinions seem sensible, we have a prima facie counterexample to modus ponens: I accept (2) and (3), but reject (4). Truth conditions or not, valid arguments obey the probability-preservation principle. I’m 100% certain that (2), 90% certain that (3), but less than 1% certain that (4).

Hook saves modus ponens by claiming that I must accept (4). For Hook, (4) is equivalent to “Either Reagan will win or Anderson will win”. As I’m 90% certain that Reagan will win, I must accept this disjunction, and hence accept (4). Hook’s reading of (4) is, of course, implausible.

Arrow saves modus ponens by claiming that, although (1) is certain, (2) is not equivalent to (1), and (2) is almost certainly false. For Stalnaker,

- If a Republican wins, then if Reagan doesn’t win, Carter will win

is true. To assess (5), we need to consider the nearest world in which a Republican wins (call it \(w)\), and ask whether the conditional consequent is true at \(w\). At \(w\), almost certainly, it is Reagan who wins. We need now to consider the nearest world to \(w\) in which Reagan does not win. Call it \(w'\). In \(w'\), almost certainly, Carter wins.

Stalnaker’s reading of (2) is implausible; intuitively, we accept (2) as equivalent to (1), and do not accept (5).

Supp can save modus ponens by denying that the argument is really of that form. “\(A\Rightarrow B\); \(A\); so \(B\)” is demonstrably valid when \(A\) and \(B\) are propositions. For instance, if \(\mathbf{p}(A) = 90\)% and \(\mathbf{p}_A (B) = 90\)% the lowest possible value for \(\mathbf{p}(B)\) is 81%. The “consequent” of (2), “If Reagan doesn’t win, Anderson will win”, is not a proposition. The argument is really of the form “If \(A \amp B\), then \(C\); \(A\); so if \(B\) then \(C\)”. This argument form is invalid (Supp and Stalnaker agree). It is one of the many argument forms which do preserve certainty, but do not preserve high probability. Take the case where \(C = A\), and we have “If \(A \amp B\) then \(A\); \(A\); so if \(B\) then \(A\)”. The first premise is a tautology and falls out as redundant; and we are left with “\(A\); so if \(B\) then \(A\)”. We have already seen that this is invalid: I can think it very likely that Sue is lecturing right now, without thinking that if she was seriously injured on her way to work, she is lecturing right now.

I have put this in the terms of the kind of suppositionalist who eliminates the embedded conditional by paraphrase. If we do develop a systematic account of the embedded conditional, it is surely a desideratum that (1) and (2) are equivalent. In that case, modus ponens is fine for propositions, but not when applied to a consequent which is not a proposition.

Compounds of conditionals are a hard problem for everyone. It is difficult to see why this should be so if conditionals are propositions with truth conditions.

## 6. Other Conditional Speech Acts and Propositional Attitudes

As well as conditional beliefs, there are conditional desires, hopes, fears, etc.. As well as conditional statements, there are conditional commands, questions, offers, promises, bets, etc.. “If he calls” plays the same role in “If he calls, what shall I say?”, “If he calls, tell him I’m out” and “If he calls, Mary will be pleased”. Which of our theories extends to these other kinds of conditional?

One believes that \(B\) to the extent that one thinks \(B\) more likely than not \(B\); according to Supp, one believes that \(B\) if \(A\) to the extent that one believes that \(B\) under the supposition that \(A\), i.e. to the extent that one thinks \(A \amp B\) more likely than \(A \amp{\sim}B\); and there is no proposition \(X\) such that one must believe \(X\) more likely than \({\sim}X\), just to the extent that one believes \(A \amp B\) more likely than \(A \amp{\sim}B\). Conditional desires appear to be like conditional beliefs: to desire that \(B\) is to prefer \(B\) to \({\sim}B\); to desire that \(B\) if \(A\) is to prefer \(A \amp B\) to \(A \amp{\sim}B\); there is no proposition \(X\) such that one prefers \(X\) to \({\sim}X\) just to the extent that one prefers \(A \amp B\) to \(A \amp{\sim}B\). I have entered a competition and have a very small chance of winning. I express the desire that if I win the prize \((W)\), you tell Fred straight away \((T)\). I prefer \(W \amp T\) to \(W \amp{\sim}T\). I do not necessarily prefer \((W \supset T)\) to \({\sim}(W \supset T)\), i.e. \(({\sim}W\) or \(W \amp T)\) to \(W \amp{\sim}T\). For I also want to win the prize, and much the most likely way for \(({\sim}W\) or \(W \amp T)\) to be true is that I don’t win the prize. Nor is my conditional desire satisfied if I don’t win but in the nearest possible world in which I win, you tell Fred straight away.

If I believe that \(B\) if \(A\), i.e. (according to Supp) think \(A \amp B\) much more likely than \(A \amp{\sim}B\), this puts me in a position to make a conditional commitment to \(B\): to assert that \(B\), conditionally upon \(A\). If \(A\) is found to be true, my conditional assertion has the force of an assertion of \(B\). If \(A\) is false, there is no proposition that I asserted. I did, however, express my conditional belief — it is not as though I said nothing. Suppose I say “If you press that switch, there will be an explosion”, and my hearer takes me to have made a conditional assertion of the consequent, one which will have the force of an assertion of the consequent if she presses the button. Provided she takes me to be trustworthy and reliable, she thinks that if she presses the switch, the consequent is likely to be true. That is, she acquires a reason to think that if she presses it, there will be an explosion; and hence a reason not to press it.

Conditional commands can, likewise, be construed as having the force of a command of the consequent, conditional upon the antecedent’s being true. The doctor says to the nurse in the emergency ward, “If the patient is still alive in the morning, change the dressing”. Considered as a command to make Hook’s conditional true, this is equivalent to “Make it the case that either the patient is not alive in the morning, or you change the dressing”. The nurse puts a pillow over the patient’s face and kills her. On the truth-functional interpretation, the nurse can claim that he was carrying out the doctor’s order. Extending Jackson’s account to conditional commands, the doctor said “Make it the case that either the patient is not alive in the morning, or you change the dressing”, and indicated that she would still command this if she knew that the patient would be alive. This doesn’t help. The nurse who kills the patient still carried out an order. Why should the nurse be concerned with what the doctor would command in a counterfactual situation?

Hook will reply to the above argument about conditional commands that we need to appeal to pragmatics. Typically, for any command, conditional or not, there are tacitly understood reasonable and unreasonable ways of obeying it; and killing the patient is to be tacitly understood as a totally unreasonable way of making the truth-functional conditional true — as, indeed, would be changing the dressing in such an incompetent way that you almost strangle the patient in the process. The latter clearly is obeying the command, but not in the intended manner. But it is stretching pragmatics rather far to say the same of the former. To take a less dramatic example, at Fred’s request, the Head of Department agrees to bring it about that he gives the Kant lectures if his appointment is extended. She then puts every effort into making sure that his appointment is not extended. Is it plausible to say that this is doing what she was asked to do, albeit not in the intended way?

Extending Stalnaker’s account to conditional commands, “If it rains, take your umbrella” becomes “In the nearest possible world in which it rains, take your umbrella”. Suppose I have forgotten your command or alternatively am inclined to disregard it. However, it doesn’t rain. In the nearest world in which it rains, I don’t take my umbrella. On Stalnaker’s account, I disobeyed you. Similarly for conditional promises: on this analysis I could break my promise to go to the doctor if the pain gets worse, even if the pain gets better. This is wrong: conditional commands and promises are not requirements on my behaviour in other possible worlds.

Among conditional questions we can distinguish those in which the addressee is presumed to know whether the antecedent is true, and those in which he is not. In the latter case, the addressee is being asked to suppose that the antecedent is true, and give his opinion about the consequent: “If it rains, will the match be cancelled?”. In the former case — “If you have been to London, did you like it?” — he is expected to answer the consequent-question if the antecedent is true. If the antecedent is false, the question lapses: there is no conditional belief for him to express. “Not applicable” as the childless might write on a form which asks “If you have children, how many children do you have?”. You are not being asked how many children you have in the nearest possible world in which you have children. Nor is it permissible to answer “17” on the grounds that “I have children \(\supset\) I have 17 children” is true. Nor are you being asked what you would believe about the consequent if you came to believe that you did have children.

Widening our perspective to include these other conditionals tends to confirm Supp’s view. Any propositional attitude can be held categorically, or under a supposition. Any speech act can be performed unconditionally, or conditionally upon something else. Our uses of “if”, on the whole, seem to be better and more uniformly explained without invoking conditional propositions.

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