# Classical Logic

*First published Sat Sep 16, 2000; substantive revision Wed Aug 28, 2013*

Typically, a *logic* consists of a formal or informal language
together with a deductive system and/or a model-theoretic semantics.
The language has components that correspond to a part of a natural language like
English or Greek. The deductive system is to capture, codify, or
simply record *arguments* that are *valid* for the given
language, and the semantics is to capture, codify, or record the
meanings, or truth-conditions for at least part of the language.

The following sections provide the basics of a typical logic,
sometimes called “classical elementary logic” or “classical
first-order logic”. Section 2 develops a formal language, with a
rigorous syntax and grammar. The formal language is a recursively
defined collection of strings on a fixed alphabet. As such, it has
no meaning, or perhaps better, the meaning of its formulas is given
by the deductive system and the semantics. Some of the symbols have
counterparts in ordinary language. We define an *argument* to
be a non-empty collection of formulas in the formal language, one of
which is designated to be the conclusion. The other formulas (if
any) in an argument are its premises. Section 3 sets up a deductive
system for the language, in the spirit of natural deduction. An
argument is *derivable* if there is a deduction from some or all of
its premises to its conclusion. Section 4 provides a model-theoretic
semantics. An argument is *valid* if there is no
interpretation (in the semantics) in which its premises are all true
and its conclusion false. This reflects the longstanding view that a
valid argument is truth-preserving.

In Section 5, we turn to relationships between the deductive system
and the semantics, and in particular, the relationship between
derivability and validity. We show that an argument is derivable only
if it is valid. This pleasant feature, called *soundness*,
entails that no deduction takes one from true premises to a false
conclusion. Thus, deductions preserve truth, and there aren't too
many deductions. Then we establish a converse, called
*completeness*, that an argument is valid only if it is
derivable. This establishes that the deductive system is rich enough
to provide a deduction for every valid argument. So there are enough
deductions: all and only valid arguments are derivable. We briefly
indicate other features of the logic, some of which are corollaries to
soundness and completeness.

- 1. Introduction
- 2. Language
- 3. Deduction
- 4. Semantics
- 5. Meta-theory
- Bibliography
- Academic Tools
- Other Internet Resources
- Related Entries

## 1. Introduction

Today, logic is a branch of mathematics and a branch of philosophy.
In most large universities, both departments offer courses in logic,
and there is usually a lot of overlap between them. Formal languages,
deductive systems, and model-theoretic semantics are mathematical
objects and, as such, the logician is interested in their mathematical
properties and relations. Soundness, completeness, and most of the
other results reported below are typical examples. Philosophically,
logic is at least closely related to the study of *correct
reasoning*. Reasoning is an epistemic, mental activity. So logic
is at least closely allied with epistemology. In recent decades,
logic has also become a central branch of computer science, due, in
part, to interesting computational relations in logical systems, and,
in part, to the close connection between formal deductive
argumentation and reasoning (see the entries on
recursive functions,
computability and complexity, and
philosophy of computer science).

This raises questions concerning the philosophical relevance of the various mathematical aspects of logic. How do deducibility and validity, as properties of formal languages--sets of strings on a fixed alphabet--relate to correct reasoning? What do the mathematical results reported below have to do with the original philosophical issues concerning valid reasoning? This is an instance of the philosophical problem of explaining how mathematics applies to non-mathematical reality.

Typically, ordinary deductive reasoning takes place in a natural language, or perhaps a natural language augmented with some mathematical symbols. So our question begins with the relationship between a natural language and a formal language. Without attempting to be comprehensive, it may help to sketch several options on this matter.

One view is that the formal languages accurately exhibit actual
features of certain fragments of a natural language. Some
philosophers claim that declarative sentences of natural language
have underlying *logical forms* and that these forms are
displayed by formulas of a formal language. Other writers hold that
(successful) declarative sentences express *propositions*; and
formulas of formal languages somehow display the forms of these
propositions. On views like this, the components of a logic provide
the underlying deep structure of correct reasoning. A chunk of
reasoning in natural language is correct if the forms underlying the
sentences constitute a valid or deducible argument. See for example,
Montague [1974], Davidson [1984], Lycan [1984] (and the
entry on
logical form).

Another view, held at least in part by Gottlob Frege and Wilhelm
Leibniz, is that because natural languages are fraught with vagueness
and ambiguity, they should be *replaced* by formal languages. A
similar view, held by W. V. O. Quine (e.g., [1960], [1986]), is that a
natural language should be *regimented*, cleaned up for serious
scientific and metaphysical work. One desideratum of the enterprise is
that the logical structures in the regimented language should be
transparent. It should be easy to “read off” the logical
properties of each sentence. A regimented language is similar to a
formal language regarding, for example, the explicitly presented rigor
of its syntax and its truth conditions.

On a view like this, deducibility and validity represent
*idealizations* of correct reasoning in natural language. A
chunk of reasoning is correct to the extent that it corresponds to,
or can be regimented by, a valid or deducible argument in a formal
language.

When mathematicians and many philosophers engage in deductive
reasoning, they occasionally invoke formulas in a formal language to
help disambiguate, or otherwise clarify what they mean. In other
words, sometimes formulas in a formal language are *used* in
ordinary reasoning. This suggests that one might think of a formal
language as an
*addendum* to a natural language. Then our present question
concerns the relationship between this addendum and the original
language. What do deducibility and validity, as sharply defined on
the addendum, tell us about correct deductive reasoning in general?

Another view is that a formal language is a *mathematical
model* of a natural language in roughly the same sense as, say, a
collection of point masses is a model of a system of physical
objects, and the Bohr construction is a model of an atom. In other
words, a formal language displays certain features of natural
languages, or idealizations thereof, while ignoring or simplifying
other features. The purpose of mathematical models is to shed light
on what they are models of, without claiming that the model is
accurate in all respects or that the model should replace what it is
a model of. On a view like this, deducibility and validity represent
mathematical models of (perhaps different aspects of) correct
reasoning in natural languages. Correct chunks of deductive reasoning
correspond, more or less, to valid or deducible arguments; incorrect
chunks of reasoning roughly correspond to invalid or non-deducible
arguments. See, for example, Corcoran [1973], Shapiro [1998], and Cook [2002].

There is no need to adjudicate this matter here. Perhaps the truth lies in a combination of the above options, or maybe some other option is the correct, or most illuminating one. I raise the matter only to lend some philosophical perspective to the formal treatment that follows.

## 2. Language

Here we develop the basics of a formal language, or to be precise, a class of formal languages. Again, a formal language is a recursively defined set of strings on a fixed alphabet. Some aspects of the formal languages correspond to, or have counterparts in, natural languages like English. Technically, this “counterpart relation” is not part of the formal development, but I will mention it from time to time, to motivate some of the features and results.

### Building blocks

We begin with analogues of *singular terms*, linguistic items
whose function is to denote a person or object. We call these
*terms*. We assume a stock of *individual constants*.
These are lower-case letters, near the beginning of the Roman
alphabet, with or without numerical subscripts:

a,a_{1},b_{23},c,d_{22}, etc.

We envisage a potential infinity of individual constants. In the
present system each constant is a single character, and so individual
constants do not have an internal syntax. Thus we have an infinite
alphabet. This could be avoided by taking a constant like
*d*_{22}, for example, to consist of three characters,
a lowercase “*d*” followed by a pair of subscript
“2”s.

We also assume a stock of *individual variables*. These are
lower-case letters, near the end of the alphabet, with or without
numerical subscripts:

w,x,y_{12},z,z_{4}, etc.

In ordinary mathematical reasoning, variables serve a dual function. Sometimes
a variable is used as a
singular term to denote a specific, but unspecified (or arbitrary)
object. For example, a mathematician might start a derivation: “Let
*x* be a prime natural number”. Variables are also used to express
generality, as in the mathematical assertion that for any natural
number *x*, there is a natural number *y*, such that
*y*>*x* and *y* is prime.

Both uses are recapitulated in the formal treatment below. Some logicians employ different symbols for unspecified objects (sometimes called “individual parameters”) and variables used to express generality.

Constants and variables are the only terms in our formal language, so
all of our terms are simple, corresponding to proper names and some
uses of pronouns. Some authors also introduce *function
letters*, which allow complex terms corresponding to:
“7+4” and “the wife of Bill Clinton”, or
complex terms containing variables, like “the father
of *x*” and “*x*/*y*”. Logic
books aimed at mathematicians are likely to contain function letters,
probably due to the centrality of functions to mathematical
discourse. Books aimed at a more general audience (or at philosophy
students), may leave out function letters, since it simplifies the
syntax and theory. We follow the latter route here. This is an
instance of a general tradeoff between presenting a system with
greater expressive resources, at the cost of making its formal
treatment more complex.

For each natural number *n*, we introduce a stock of
*n*-place *predicate letters*. These are upper-case
letters at the beginning or middle of the alphabet. A superscript
indicates the number of places, and there may or may not be a
subscript. For example,

A^{3},B^{3}_{2},P^{3}, etc.

are three-place predicate letters. We often omit the superscript, when no confusion will result. We also add a special two-place predicate symbol “=” for identity.

Zero-place predicate letters are sometimes called “sentence letters”. They correspond to free-standing sentences whose internal structure does not matter. One-place predicate letters, called “monadic predicate letters”, correspond to linguistic items denoting properties, like “being a man”, “being red”, or “being a prime number”. Two-place predicate letters, called “binary predicate letters”, correspond to linguistic items denoting binary relations, like “is a parent of” or “is greater than”. Three-place predicate letters correspond to three-place relations, like “lies on a straight line between”. And so on.

The *non-logical terminology* of the language consists of its
individual constants and predicate letters. The symbol “=”, for
identity, is not a non-logical symbol. In taking identity to be
logical, we provide explicit treatment for it in the deductive system
and in the model-theoretic semantics. Most authors do the same, but
there is some controversy over the issue (Quine [1986, Chapter
5]). If *K* is a set of constants and predicate letters, then
we give the fundamentals of a language
L1*K*=
built on this set of non-logical terminology. It may be called the
*first-order language with identity* on *K*. A similar
language that lacks the symbol for identity (or which takes identity
to be non-logical) may be called
L1*K*,
the *first-order language without identity* on *K*.

### Atomic formulas

If *V* is an *n*-place predicate letter in *K*,
and *t*_{1}, …, *t*_{n}
are terms of *K* (i.e., constants in *K* or variables),
then *Vt*_{1} … *t*_{n}
is an *atomic formula* of
L1*K*=.
Notice that the terms *t*_{1}, …,
*t*_{n} need not be distinct. Examples of
atomic formulas include:

P^{4}xaab,C^{1}x,C^{1}a,D^{0},A^{3}abc.

The last one is an analogue of a statement that a certain relation
(*A*) holds between three objects (*a*, *b*,
*c*). If *t*_{1} and *t*_{2} are
terms, then *t*_{1}=*t*_{2} is also an
atomic formula of
L1*K*=. It corresponds
to an assertion that *t*_{1} is identical to
*t*_{2}.

If an atomic formula has no variables, then it is called an
*atomic sentence*. If it does have variables, it is
called *open*. In the above list of examples, the first and
second are open; the rest are sentences.

### Compound formulas

We now introduce the final items of the lexicon:

¬, &, ∨, →, ∀, ∃, (, )

We give a recursive definition of a *formula* of
L1*K*=:

1. All atomic formulas of L1K= are formulas of L1K=.2. If θ is a formula of L1

K=, then so is ¬θ.

A sentence corresponding to ¬θ thus says that it is not the case that θ. The symbol “¬” is called “negation”, and is a unary connective.

3. If θ and ψ are formulas of L1K=, then so is (θ & ψ).

The ampersand “&” corresponds to the English “and” (when “and” is used to connect sentences). So (θ & ψ) can be read “θ and ψ”. The formula (θ & ψ) is called the “conjunction” of θ and ψ.

4. If θ and ψ are formulas of L1K=, then so is (θ ∨ ψ).

The wedge “∨” corresponds to “either … or … or both”, so (θ ∨ ψ) can be read “θ or ψ”. The formula (θ ∨ ψ) is called the “disjunction” of θ and ψ.

5. If θ and ψ are formulas of L1K=, then so is (θ → ψ).

The arrow “→” roughly corresponds to “if … then … ”, so (θ → ψ) can be read “if θ then ψ” or “θ only if ψ”.

The symbols “&”, “∨”, and “→” are called “binary connectives”, since they serve to “connect” two sentences into one. Some authors introduce (θ ↔ ψ) as an abbreviation of ((θ → ψ) & (ψ → θ)). The symbol “↔” is an analogue of the locution “if and only if”.

6. If θ is a formula of L1K= andvis a variable, then ∀vθ is a formula of L1K=.

The symbol
“∀” is called a *universal
quantifier*, and is an analogue of “for all”; so
∀*v*θ
can be read “for all *v*,
θ”.

7. If θ is a formula of L1K= andvis a variable, then ∃vθ is a formula of L1K=.

The symbol “∃” is called an
*existential quantifier*, and is an analogue of “there
exists” or “there is”; so ∃*v* θ
can be read “there is a *v* such that θ”.

8. That's all folks. That is, all formulas are constructed in accordance with rules (1)-(7).

Clause (8) allows us to do inductions on the complexity of formulas. If a certain property holds of the atomic formulas and is closed under the operations presented in clauses (2)-(7), then the property holds of all formulas. Here is a simple example:

Theorem 1. Every formula of L1K= has the same number of left and right parentheses. Moreover, each left parenthesis corresponds to a unique right parenthesis, which occurs to the right of the left parenthesis. Similarly, each right parenthesis corresponds to a unique left parenthesis, which occurs to the left of the given right parenthesis. If a parenthesis occurs between a matched pair of parentheses, then its mate also occurs within that matched pair. In other words, parentheses that occur within a matched pair are themselves matched.

Proof: By clause (8), every formula is built up from the atomic formulas using clauses (2)-(7). The atomic formulas have no parentheses. Parentheses are introduced only in clauses (3)-(5), and each time they are introduced as a matched set. So at any stage in the construction of a formula, the parentheses are paired off.

We next define the notion of an occurrence of a variable being
*free* or *bound* in a formula. A variable that
immediately follows a quantifier (as in
“∀*x*” and
“∃*y*”) is neither free nor bound. We do
not even think of those as occurrences of the variable. All
variables that occur in an atomic formula are free. If a variable
occurs free (or bound) in θ or in ψ, then that same
occurrence is free (or bound) in ¬θ, (θ &
ψ), (θ ∨ ψ), and (θ → ψ). That is,
the (unary and binary) connectives do not change the status of
variables that occur in them. All occurrences of the
variable *v* in θ are bound in ∀*v*
θ and ∃*v* θ. Any *free*
occurrences of *v* in θ are bound by the initial
quantifier. All other variables that occur in θ are free or
bound in ∀*v* θ and ∃*v* θ,
as they are in θ.

For example, in the formula
(∀x(*Axy*
∨
*Bx*) & *Bx*), the occurrences of “*x*” in
*Axy* and in the first *Bx* are bound by the
quantifier. The occurrence of “*y*” and last
occurrence of “*x*” are free. In
∀*x*(*Ax* → ∃*xBx*), the
“*x*” in *Ax* is bound by the initial
universal quantifier, while the other occurrence of *x* is
bound by the existential quantifier. The above syntax allows this
“double-binding”. Although it does not create any
ambiguities (see below), we will avoid such formulas, as a matter of
taste and clarity.

The syntax also allows so-called vacuous binding, as in
∀x*Bc*. These, too, will be avoided in what follows.
Some treatments of logic rule out vacuous binding and double binding
as a matter of syntax. That simplifies some of the treatments below,
and complicates others.

Free variables correspond to place-holders, while bound variables
are used to express generality. If a formula has no free variables,
then it is called a *sentence*. If a formula has free
variables, it is called *open*.

### Features of the syntax

Before turning to the deductive system and semantics, I mention a few features of the language, as developed so far. This helps draw the contrast between formal languages and natural languages like English.

We assume at the outset that all of the categories are disjoint. For example, no connective is also a quantifier or a variable, and the non-logical terms are not also parentheses or connectives. Also, the items within each category are distinct. For example, the sign for disjunction does not do double-duty as the negation symbol, and perhaps more significantly, no two-place predicate is also a one-place predicate.

One difference between natural languages like English and formal
languages like
L1*K*= is that the latter are not
supposed to have any ambiguities. The policy that the different
categories of symbols do not overlap, and that no symbol does
double-duty, avoids the kind of ambiguity, sometimes called
“equivocation”, that occurs when a single word has two meanings:
“I'll meet you at the bank.” But there are other kinds of
ambiguity. Consider the English sentence:

John is married, and Mary is single, or Joe is crazy.

It can mean that John is married and either Mary is single or Joe is
crazy, or else it can mean that either both John is married and Mary
is single, or else Joe is crazy. An ambiguity like this, due to
different ways to parse the same sentence, is sometimes called an
“amphiboly”. If our formal language did not have the
parentheses in it, it would have amphibolies. For example, there would
be a “formula” *A* & *B* ∨*
C*. Is this supposed to be ((*A* & *B*)
∨ *C*), or is it (*A* & (*B*
∨ *C*))? The parentheses resolve what would be an
amphiboly.

Can we be sure that there are no other amphibolies in our language?
That is, can we be sure that each formula of
L1*K*= can be put
together in only one way? Our next task is to answer this question.

Let us temporarily use the term “unary marker” for the negation
symbol (¬) or a quantifier followed by a variable (e.g.,
∀*x*,
∃*z*).

Lemma 2. Each formula consists of a string of zero or more unary markers followed by either an atomic formula or a formula produced using a binary connective, via one of clauses (3)-(5).

Proof: We proceed by induction on the complexity of the formula or, in other words, on the number of formation rules that are applied. The Lemma clearly holds for atomic formulas. Letnbe a natural number, and suppose that the Lemma holds for any formula constructed fromnor fewer instances of clauses (2)-(7). Let θ be a formula constructed fromn+1 instances. The Lemma holds if the last clause used to construct θ was either (3), (4), or (5). If the last clause used to construct θ was (2), then θ is ¬ψ. Since ψ was constructed withninstances of the rule, the Lemma holds for ψ (by the induction hypothesis), and so it holds for θ. Similar reasoning shows the Lemma to hold for θ if the last clause was (6) or (7). By clause (8), this exhausts the cases, and so the Lemma holds for θ, by induction.

Lemma 3. If a formula θ contains a left parenthesis, then it ends with a right parenthesis, which matches the leftmost left parenthesis in θ.

Proof: Here we also proceed by induction on the number of instances of (2)-(7) used to construct the formula. Clearly, the Lemma holds for atomic formulas, since they have no parentheses. Suppose, then, that the Lemma holds for formulas constructed withnor fewer instances of (2)-(7), and let θ be constructed withn+1 instances. If the last clause applied was (3)-(5), then the Lemma holds since θ itself begins with a left parenthesis and ends with the matching right parenthesis. If the last clause applied was (2), then θ is ¬ψ, and the induction hypothesis applies to ψ. Similarly, if the last clause applied was (6) or (7), then θ consists of a quantifier, a variable, and a formula to which we can apply the induction hypothesis. It follows that the Lemma holds for θ.

Lemma 4. Each formula contains at least one atomic formula.

The proof proceeds by induction on the number of instances of (2)-(7) used to construct the formula, and we leave it as an exercise.

Theorem 5. Let α, β be nonempty sequences of characters on our alphabet, such that αβ (i.e α followed by β) is a formula. Then α isnota formula.

Proof: By Theorem 1 and Lemma 3, if α contains a left parenthesis, then the right parenthesis that matches the leftmost left parenthesis in αβ comes at the end of αβ, and so the matching right parenthesis is in β. So, α has more left parentheses than right parentheses. By Theorem 1, α is not a formula. So now suppose that α does not contain any left parentheses. By Lemma 2, αβ consists of a string of zero or more unary markers followed by either an atomic formula or a formula produced using a binary connective, via one of clauses (3)-(5). If the latter formula was produced via one of clauses (3)-(5), then it begins with a left parenthesis. Since α does not contain any parentheses, it must be a string of unary markers. But then α does not contain any atomic formulas, and so by Lemma 4, α is not a formula. The only case left is where αβ consists of a string of unary markers followed by an atomic formula, either in the formt_{1}=t_{2}orPt_{1}…t_{n}. Again, if α just consisted of unary markers, it would not be a formula, and so α must consist of the unary markers that start αβ, followed by eithert_{1}by itself,t_{1}= by itself, or the predicate letterP, and perhaps some (but not all) of the termst_{1}, … ,t_{n}. In the first two cases, α does not contain an atomic formula, by the policy that the categories do not overlap. SincePis ann-place predicate letter, by the policy that the predicate letters are distinct,Pis not anm-place predicate letter for anym≠ n. So the part of α that consists ofPfollowed by the terms is not an atomic formula. In all of these cases, then, α does not contain an atomic formula. By Lemma 4, α is not a formula.

We are finally in position to show that there is no amphiboly in our language.

Theorem 6. Let θ be any formula of L1K=. If θ is not atomic, then there is one and only one among (2)-(7) that was the last clause applied to construct θ. That is, θ could not be produced by two different clauses. Moreover, no formula produced by clauses (3)-(7) is atomic.

Proof: By Clause (8), either θ is atomic or it was produced by one of clauses (2)-(7). Thus, the first symbol in θ must be either a predicate letter, a term, a unary marker, or a left parenthesis. If the first symbol in θ is a predicate letter or term, then θ is atomic. In this case, θ was not produced by any of (2)-(7), since all such formulas begin with something other than a predicate letter or term. If the first symbol in θ is a negation sign “¬”, then was θ produced by clause (2), and not by any other clause (since the other clauses produce formulas that begin with either a quantifier or a left parenthesis). Similarly, if θ begins with a universal quantifier, then it was produced by clause (6), and not by any other clause, and if θ begins with an existential quantifier, then it was produced by clause (7), and not by any other clause. The only case left is where θ begins with a left parenthesis. In this case, it must have been produced by one of (3)-(5), and not by any other clause. We only need to rule out the possibility that θ was produced by more than one of (3)-(5). To take an example, suppose that θ was produced by (3) and (4). Then θ is (ψ_{1}& ψ_{2}) and θ is also (ψ_{3}∨ ψ_{4}), where ψ_{1}, ψ_{2}, ψ_{3}, and ψ_{4}are themselves formulas. That is, (ψ_{1}& ψ_{2}) is the very same formula as (ψ_{3}∨ ψ_{4}). By Theorem 5, ψ_{1}cannot be a proper part of ψ_{3}, nor can ψ_{3}be a proper part of ψ_{1}. So ψ_{1}must be the same formula as ψ_{3}. But then “&” must be the same symbol as “∨”, and this contradicts the policy that all of the symbols are different. So θ was not produced by both Clause (3) and Clause (4). Similar reasoning takes care of the other combinations.

This result is sometimes called “unique readability”. It
shows that each formula is produced from the atomic formulas via the
various clauses in exactly one way. If θ was produced by clause
(2), then its *main connective* is the initial
“¬”. If θ was produced by clauses (3), (4), or
(5), then its *main connective* is the introduced
“&”, “∨”, or “→”,
respectively. If θ was produced by clauses (6) or (7), then
its *main connective* is the initial quantifier. I apologize
for the tedious details. I included them to indicate the level of
precision and rigor for the syntax.

## 3. Deduction

We now introduce a *deductive system*, *D*, for our
languages. As above, we define an *argument* to be a non-empty
collection of formulas in the formal language, one of which is
designated to be the *conclusion*. If there are any other
formulas in the argument, they are its *premises*. By
convention, we use
“Γ”,
“Γ′”,
“Γ_{1}”, etc, to
range over sets of formulas, and we use the letters
“φ”,
“ψ”,
“θ”, uppercase or lowercase, with
or without subscripts, to range over single formulas. We write
“Γ,
Γ′” for the union of
Γ and
Γ′, and
“Γ,
φ” for the union of
Γ with
{φ}.

We write an argument in the form
<Γ,
φ>,
where
Γ is the set of premises and
φ is the conclusion. Remember
that
Γ may be empty. We write
Γ ⊢ φ
to indicate that
φ is deducible from
Γ, or, in other words, that
the argument
<Γ,
φ>
is deducible in *D*. We may write
Γ ⊢_{D}
φ
to emphasize the deductive system *D*. We write ⊢ φ
or
⊢_{D} φ
to indicate that
φ can be deduced (in
*D*) from the empty set of premises.

The rules in *D* are chosen to match logical relations
concerning the English analogues of the logical terminology in the
language. Again, we define the deducibility relation by recursion. We
start with a rule of assumptions:

(As)If φ is a member of Γ, then Γ ⊢ φ.

We thus have that {φ} ⊢ φ; each premise follows from itself. We next present two clauses for each connective and quantifier. The clauses indicate how to “introduce” and “eliminate” formulas in which each symbol is the main connective.

First, recall that “&” is an analogue of the English connective “and”. Intuitively, one can deduce a formula in the form (θ & ψ) if one has deduced θ and one has deduced ψ. Conversely, one can deduce θ from (θ & ψ) and one can deduce ψ from (θ & ψ):

(&I)If Γ_{1}⊢ θ and Γ_{2}⊢ ψ, then Γ_{1}, Γ_{2}⊢ (θ & ψ).

(&E)If Γ ⊢ (θ & ψ) then Γ ⊢ θ; and if Γ ⊢ (θ & ψ) then Γ ⊢ ψ.

The name “&I” stands for “&-introduction”; “&E” stands for “&-elimination”.

Since, the symbol “∨” corresponds to the English “or”, (θ ∨ ψ) should be deducible from θ, and (θ ∨ ψ) should also be deducible from ψ:

(∨I) If Γ ⊢ θ then Γ ⊢ (θ ∨ ψ); if Γ ⊢ ψ then Γ ⊢ (θ ∨ ψ).

The elimination rule is a bit more complicated. Suppose that “θ or ψ” is true. Suppose also that φ follows from θ and that φ follows from ψ. One can reason that if θ is true, then φ is true. If instead ψ is true, we still have that φ is true. So either way, φ must be true.

(∨E) If Γ_{1}⊢ (θ ∨ ψ), Γ_{2}, θ ⊢ φ and Γ_{3}, ψ ⊢ φ, then Γ_{1}, Γ_{2}, Γ_{3}⊢ φ.

For the next clauses, recall that the symbol “→” is an analogue of the English “if … then … ” construction. If one knows, or assumes (θ → ψ) and also knows, or assumes θ, then one can conclude ψ. Conversely, if one deduces ψ from an assumption θ, then one can conclude that (θ → ψ).

(→I) If Γ, θ ⊢ ψ, then Γ ⊢ (θ → ψ).(→

E) If Γ_{1}⊢ (θ → ψ) and Γ_{2}⊢ θ , then Γ_{1}, Γ_{2}⊢ ψ.

This elimination rule is sometimes called “modus ponens”. In some logic texts, the introduction rule is proved as a “deduction theorem”.

Our next clauses are for the negation sign, “¬”. The
underlying idea is that a formula ψ is inconsistent with its
negation ¬ψ. They cannot both be true. We call a pair of
formulas ψ, ¬ψ *contradictory opposites*. If one
can deduce such a pair from an assumption θ, then one can
conclude that θ is false, or, in other words, one can conclude
¬θ.

(¬I)If Γ_{1}, θ ⊢ ψ and Γ_{2}, θ ⊢ ¬ψ, then Γ_{1}, Γ_{2}⊢ ¬θ.

By (As), we have that
{*A*,¬*A*} ⊢ *A* and
{*A,¬A*} ⊢ ¬*A*. So by
¬I we have that
{*A*} ⊢ ¬¬*A*. However, we
do not have the converse yet. Intuitively, ¬¬θ
corresponds to “it is not the case that it is not the case
that” . One might think that this last is equivalent to θ,
and we have a rule to that effect:

(DNE)If Γ ⊢ ¬¬θ, then Γ ⊢ θ.

The name DNE stands for “double-negation
elimination”. There is some controversy over this inference. It
is rejected by philosophers and mathematicians who do not hold that
each meaningful sentence is either true or not
true. *Intuitionistic logic* does not sanction the inference in
question (see, for example Dummett [2000], or the entry on
intuitionistic logic, or
history of intuitionistic logic),
but, again, classical logic does.

To illustrate the parts of the deductive system *D* presented
thus far, I show that ⊢ (*A*
∨
¬*A*):

(i) {¬(A∨ ¬A),A} ⊢ ¬(A∨ ¬A), by (As)(ii) {¬(

A∨ ¬A),A} ⊢A, by (As).(iii) {¬(

A∨ ¬A),A} ⊢ (A∨ ¬A), by (∨I), from (ii).(iv) {¬(

A∨ ¬A)} ⊢ ¬A,by (¬I), from (i) and (iii).(v) {¬(

A∨ ¬A), ¬A} ⊢ ¬(A∨ ¬A), by (As)(vi) {¬(

A∨ ¬A), ¬A} ⊢ ¬A, by (As)(vii) {¬(

A∨ ¬A), ¬A} ⊢ (A∨ ¬A), by (∨I), from (vi).(viii) {¬(

A∨ ¬A)} ⊢ ¬¬A, by (¬I), from (v) and (vii).(ix) ⊢ ¬¬(

A∨ ¬A), by (¬I), from (iv) and (viii).(x) ⊢ (

A∨ ¬A), by (DNE), from (ix).

The principle
(θ
∨
¬θ) is sometimes called the
*law of
excluded middle*. It is not valid in intuitionistic logic.

Let θ, ¬θ be a pair of contradictory opposites, and let ψ be any formula at all. By (As) we have {θ, ¬θ, ¬ψ} ⊢ θ and {θ, ¬θ, ¬ψ} ⊢ ¬θ. So by (¬I), {θ, ¬θ} ⊢ ¬¬ψ. So, by (DNE) we have {θ, ¬θ} ⊢ ψ . That is, anything at all follows from a pair of contradictory opposites. Some logicians introduce a rule to codify a similar inference:

If Γ_{1}⊢ θ and Γ_{2}⊢ ¬θ, then for any formula ψ, Γ_{1}, Γ_{2}⊢ ψ

The inference is sometimes called *ex falso quodlibet* or, more
colorfully, *explosion*. Some call it
“¬-elimination”, but perhaps this stretches the notion
of “elimination” a bit. We do not officially
include *ex falso quodlibet* as a separate rule in *D*,
but as will be shown below (Theorem 10), each instance of it is
derivable in our system *D*.

Some logicians object to *ex falso quodlibet*, on the ground
that the formula ψ may be *irrelevant* to any of the
premises in Γ. Suppose, for example, that one starts with some
premises Γ about human nature and facts about certain people,
and then deduces both the sentence “Clinton had extra-marital
sexual relations” and “Clinton did not have extra-marital
sexual relations”. One can perhaps conclude that there is
something wrong with the premises Γ. But should we be allowed to
then deduce *anything at all* from Γ? Should we be
allowed to deduce “The economy is sound”?

A small minority of logicians, called *dialetheists*, hold
that some contradictions are actually true. For them, *ex falso
quodlibet* is not truth-preserving.

Deductive systems that demur from *ex falso quodlibet* are
called *paraconsistent*. Most relevant logics are
paraconsistent. See the entries on
relevance logic,
paraconsistent logic,
and
dialetheism.
Or see Anderson and Belnap [1975], Anderson, Belnap, and Dunn [1992],
and Tennant [1997] for fuller overviews of relevant logic; and Priest
[2006],[2006a] for dialetheism. Deep philosophical issues concerning
the nature of
logical consequence
are involved. Far be it for
an article in a philosophy encyclopedia to avoid philosophical issues,
but space considerations preclude a fuller treatment of this issue
here. Suffice it to note that the inference *ex falso
quodlibet* is sanctioned in systems of *classical logic*,
the subject of this article. It is essential to establishing the
balance between the deductive system and the semantics (see §5
below).

The next pieces of *D* are the clauses for the quantifiers. Let
θ be a formula, *v* a
variable, and *t* a term (i.e., a variable or a constant). Then
define
θ(*v*|*t*) to be
the result of substituting *t* for each *free* occurrence of
*v* in
θ. So, if
θ is (*Qx* &
∃*xPxy*), then
θ(*x*|*c*) is
(*Qc* &
∃*xPxy*). The last
occurrence of *x* is not free (but recall that we avoid using
formulas like this).

We have one other nicety to attend to. Suppose that
*v*_{1} and *v*_{2} are variables. It may
happen that some of the substituted instances of *v*_{2}
are bound in
θ(*v*_{1}|*v*_{2}).
When this happens, we say that there is a *clash* of the
variables. Suppose, for example, that
θ is
∃*y*(¬*x* =
*y*), and so
θ(*x*|*y*) is
∃*y*(¬*y* =
*y*). We say that a term *t* is *free for* a
variable *v* in θ if either *t* is a constant or
there is no clash of variables in θ(*v*|*t*). The
idea is that no substituted instance of *t* should become a
bound variable in θ(*v*|*t*). It might be noted
that in some treatments, only sentences appear in deductions. That
obviates the need for this nicety.

A formula in the form
∀*v*
θ is an analogue of the English “for every
*v*,
θ holds”. So one
should be able to infer
θ(*v*|*t*) from
∀*v*
θ:

(∀E) If Γ ⊢ ∀vθ, then Γ ⊢ θ(v|t), provided thattis free forvin θ.

The idea here is that if
∀*v*
θ is true, then
θ should hold
of *t*, no matter what *t* is. We can illustrate the
restriction on
(∀E) as follows: The sentence
∀*x* ∃
*y*(¬*x*=*y*) corresponds to an assertion
that for every object *x*, there is an object different from
*x*. This is a coherent, plausible assertion. It is true if and
only if the universe has at least two objects. It should follow that
no matter what object *t* may be, there is something that is is
different from *t*. However, if we were allowed to substitute
the variable *y* for *x*, we would conclude
∃*y*(¬*y*=*y*), which says that there
is something which is different from itself, a blatant falsehood.

The introduction clause for the universal quantifier is a bit
more complicated. Suppose that a formula
θ has a variable *v* free, and that
θ has been deduced from a set of premises
Γ. If the variable *v* does not occur
free in any member of
Γ, then
θ will hold no matter which object *v* may
denote. That is,
∀*v* θ follows.

(∀I) If Γ ⊢ θ and the variablevdoes not occur free in any member of Γ, then Γ ⊢ ∀vθ.

Those deductive systems that deal only with sentences typically speak
of individual constants rather than free variables here. This rule
(∀**I**) corresponds to a common inference in
mathematics. Suppose that a mathematician says “let *n*
be a natural number” and goes on to show that *n* has a
certain property *P*, without assuming anything
about *n* (except that it is a natural number). She then
reminds the reader that *n* is “arbitrary”, and
concludes that *P* holds for *all* natural numbers. The
condition that the variable
*v* not occur in any premise is what guarantees that it is
indeed “arbitrary”. It could be any object, and so anything we
conclude about it holds for all objects.

The existential quantifier is an analogue of the English expression
“there exists”, or perhaps just “there is”. If
we have established (or assumed) that a given object *t* has a
given property, then it follows that there is something that has that
property. Again, we have to be careful with the syntax, and avoid
clashes of variables.

(∃I) If Γ ⊢ θ(v|t), then Γ ⊢ ∃vθ, providedtis free forvin θ.

The elimination rule for ∃ is not quite as simple:

(∃E) If Γ_{1}⊢ ∃vθ and Γ_{2}, θ ⊢ φ, then Γ_{1}, Γ_{2}⊢ φ, provided thatvdoes not occur free in φ, nor in any member of Γ_{2}.

This elimination rule also corresponds to a common inference. Suppose
that a mathematician assumes or somehow concludes that there is a
natural number with a given property *P*. She then says
“let *n* be such a natural number, so
that *Pn*”, and goes on to establish a sentence φ,
which does not mention the number *n*. If the derivation of
φ does not invoke anything about *n* (other than the
assumption that it has the given property
*P*), then *n* could have been any number that has the
property *P*. That is, *n* is an *arbitrary*
number with property *P*. It does not matter which number
*n* is. Since
φ does not mention *n*, it follows from
the assertion that something has property *P*. The provisions
added to
(∃E) are to guarantee that
*x* is “arbitrary”.

As noted in the previous section, some authors introduce different letters for bound variables and (what amounts to) free variables. This makes the syntax slightly more complex, but simplifies the provisions on some of the rules of inference. Writers of logic books often face tradeoffs like this.

The final items are the rules for the identity sign “=”. The introduction rule is about a simple as can be:

(=I)Γ ⊢t=t, wheretis any term.

This “inference” corresponds to the truism that everything is
identical to itself. The elimination rule corresponds to a principle
that if *a* is identical to *b*, then anything true of
*a* is also true of *b*, again paying attention to
clashes of variables.

(=E)If Γ_{1}⊢t_{1}=t_{2}and Γ_{2}⊢ θ, then Γ_{1}, Γ_{2}⊢ θ′, where θ′ is obtained from θ by replacing zero or more occurrences oft_{1}witht_{2}, provided that no bound variables are replaced, and ift_{2}is a variable, then all of its substituted occurrences are free.

The rule (=E) indicates a certain restriction in the expressive
resources of our language. Suppose, for example, that Harry is identical
to Donald (since his mischievous parents gave him two names). According to most people's intuitions, it would not
follow from this and “Dick knows that Harry is wicked” that “Dick knows
that Donald is wicked”, for the reason that Dick might not know that Harry
is identical to Donald. Contexts like this, in which identicals cannot
safely be substituted for each other, are called “opaque”. We assume that
our language
L1*K*= has no opaque
contexts.

One final clause completes the description of the deductive system
*D*:

(*)That's all folks. Γ ⊢ θ only if θ follows from members of Γ by the above rules.

Again, this clause allows proofs by induction on the rules used to
establish an argument. If a property of arguments holds of all instances
of (As) and (=I), and if the other rules preserve the property, then every
argument that is deducible in *D* enjoys the property in
question.

Before moving on to the model theory for
L1*K*=, we pause to
note a few features of the deductive system. To illustrate the level of rigor, we begin with a lemma that, if there are no clashes, the choice of variable does not matter.

Lemma 7.Suppose that Γ ⊢_{D}φ, and letv′ be a variable that does not occur free in φ or in any member of Γ. Assume thatv′ is free forvin φ and in every member of Γ. Let Γ′ be {θ(v|v′) | θ ∈ Γ}. That is, Γ′ is the result of replacing every free occurrence of a variablevwithv′ in every member of Γ. Then Γ′ ⊢_{D}φ(v|v′).

Proof:The proof of this lemma is tedious, but we give its essentials. We proceed by induction on the number of rules that were used to arrive at Γ ⊢ φ. Suppose thatn>0 is a natural number, and that the lemma holds for any argument that was derived using fewer thannrules, and suppose that Γ ⊢ φ using exactlynrules. Ifn=1, then the rule applied is either (As) or (=I). In this case, Γ′ ⊢ φ(v|v′) by the same rule. If the last rule applied is (&I), then φ has the form (θ & ψ), and we have Γ_{1}⊢ θ and Γ_{2}⊢ ψ, with Γ = Γ_{1}, Γ_{2}. We apply the induction hypothesis to the deductions of θ and ψ, and then apply (&I) to the result. If the last rule applied was (&E), we have two sub-cases, but they are symmetric. We have Γ ⊢ (φ & ψ). There are two slight complications here: the new variablev′ may occur free in ψ and it may not be free forvin ψ. In either case, first pick a new variableuthat does not occur (free or bound) in (φ & ψ) or in any member of Γ. Now apply the induction hypothesis, substitutinguforv′ in the deduction Γ ⊢ (φ & ψ). Sincev′ does not occur free in φ or in any member of Γ, those formulas are left unchanged. The maneuver removes any free occurrences ofv′ from the subformula ψ. Now apply the induction hypothesis to the result, substitutingv′ forv, and then apply (&E). The remaining cases are similar.

Theorem 8. The rule of Weakening.If Γ_{1}⊢ φ and Γ_{1}⊆ Γ_{2}, then Γ_{2}⊢ φ.

Proof:Again, we proceed by induction on the number of rules that were used to arrive at Γ_{1}⊢ φ. Suppose thatn>0 is a natural number, and that the theorem holds for any argument that was derived using fewer thannrules. Suppose that Γ_{1}⊢ φ using exactlynrules. Ifn=1, then the rule is either (As) or (=I). In these cases, Γ_{2}⊢ φ by the same rule. If the last rule applied was (&I), then φ has the form (θ&ψ), and we have Γ_{3}⊢ θ and Γ_{4}⊢ ψ, with Γ_{1}= Γ_{3}, Γ_{4}. We apply the induction hypothesis to the deductions of θ and ψ, to get Γ_{2}⊢ θ and Γ_{2}⊢ ψ. and then apply (&I) to the result to get Γ_{2}⊢ φ. Most of the other cases are exactly like this. Slight complications arise only in the rules (∀I) and (∃E), because there we have to pay attention to the conditions for the rules. Starting with (∃E), we have Γ_{3}⊢ ∃vθ and Γ_{4}, θ ⊢ φ, with Γ_{1}being Γ_{3}, Γ_{4}, andvnot free in φ, nor in any member of Γ_{4}. We apply the induction hypothesis to get Γ_{2}⊢ ∃vθ, and then (∃E) to end up with Γ_{2}⊢ φ. Suppose that the last rule applied to get Γ_{1}⊢ φ is (∀I). So φ is a formula in the form ∀vθ, and we have Γ_{1}⊢ θ and the variablevdoes not occur free in any member of Γ_{1}. The problem is thatvmay occur free in a member of Γ_{2}, and so we cannot just invoke the induction hypothesis and apply (∀I) to the result. Letv′ be a variable that does not occur (free or bound) in θ or in any member of Γ_{2}, and let Γ′ be the result of substitutingv′ for every free occurrence ofvin Γ_{2}. Sincevdoes not occur free in any member of Γ_{1}, we still have Γ_{1}⊆Γ. The induction hypothesis gives us Γ′ ⊢ θ, and now we apply (∀I) to get Γ′ ⊢ φ. We now apply Lemma 7, substitutingvfor the new variablev′. The result is Γ_{2}⊢ φ.

Theorem 8 allows us to add on premises at will. It follows that Γ ⊢ φ if and only if there is a subset Γ′⊆Γ such that Γ′ ⊢ φ. Some systems of relevant logic do not have weakening, nor does substructural logic (See the entries on relevance logic, substructural logics, and linear logic).

By clause (*), all derivations are established in a finite number of steps. So we have

Theorem 9. Γ ⊢ φ if and only if there is a finite Γ′⊆Γ such that Γ′ ⊢ φ.

Theorem 10. The rule ofex falso quodlibetis a “derived rule” ofD: if Γ_{1}⊢ θ and Γ_{2}⊢ ¬θ, then Γ_{1},Γ_{2}⊢ ψ, for any formula ψ.

Proof:Suppose that Γ_{1}⊢ θ and Γ_{2}⊢ ¬θ. Then by Theorem 8, Γ_{1},¬ψ ⊢ θ, and Γ_{2},¬ψ ⊢ ¬θ. So by (¬I), Γ_{1}, Γ_{2}⊢ ¬¬ψ. By (DNE), Γ_{1}, Γ_{2}⊢ ψ.

Theorem 11. The rule of Cut. If Γ_{1}⊢ ψ and Γ_{2}, ψ ⊢ θ, then Γ_{1}, Γ_{2}⊢ θ.

Proof:Suppose Γ_{1}⊢ ψ and Γ_{2}, ψ ⊢ θ. We proceed by induction on the number of rules used to establish Γ_{2}, ψ ⊢ θ. Suppose thatnis a natural number, and that the theorem holds for any argument that was derived using fewer thannrules. Suppose that Γ_{2}, ψ ⊢ θ was derived using exactlynrules. If the last rule used was (=I), then Γ_{1}, Γ_{2}⊢ θ is also an instance of (=I). If Γ_{2}, ψ ⊢ θ is an instance of (As), then either θ is ψ, or θ is a member of Γ_{2}. In the former case, we have Γ_{1}⊢ θ by supposition, and get Γ_{1}, Γ_{2}⊢ θ by Weakening (Theorem 8). In the latter case, Γ_{1}, Γ_{2}⊢ θ is itself an instance of (As). Suppose that Γ_{2}, ψ ⊢ θ was obtained using (&E). Then we have Γ_{2}, ψ ⊢ (θ&φ). The induction hypothesis gives us Γ_{1}, Γ_{2}⊢ (θ&φ), and (&E) produces Γ_{1}, Γ_{2}⊢ θ. The remaining cases are similar.

Theorem 11 allows us to chain together inferences. This fits the practice of establishing theorems and lemmas and then using those theorems and lemmas later, at will. The cut principle is, I think, essential to reasoning. In some logical systems, the cut principle is a deep theorem; in others it is invalid. The system here was designed, in part, to make the proof of Theorem 11 straightforward.

If Γ ⊢_{D} θ, then
we say that the formula θ is a *deductive consequence*
of the set of formulas Γ, and that the argument
<Γ,θ> is *deductively valid*. A formula
θ is a *logical theorem*, or a *deductive logical
truth*,
if ⊢_{D} θ. That is,
θ is a logical theorem if it is a deductive consequence of the
empty set. A set Γ of formulas is *consistent* if there
is no formula θ such that
Γ ⊢_{D} θ and
Γ ⊢_{D} ¬θ.
That is, a set is consistent if it does not entail a pair of
contradictory opposite formulas.

Theorem 12. A set Γ is consistent if and only if there is a formula θ such that it is not the case that Γ ⊢ θ.

Proof:Suppose that Γ is consistent and let θ be any formula. Then either it is not the case that Γ ⊢ θ or it is not the case that Γ ⊢ ¬θ. For the converse, suppose that Γ is inconsistent and let ψ be any formula. We have that there is a formula such that both Γ ⊢ θ and Γ ⊢ ¬θ. Byex falso quodlibet(Theorem 10), Γ ⊢ ψ.

Define a set
Γ of formulas of the language
L1*K*= to be *maximally
consistent* if Γ is consistent and for
every formula θ of
L1*K*=,
if
θ is not in
Γ, then Γ,θ is inconsistent. In other words,
Γ
is maximally consistent if
Γ is consistent, and adding any formula in the
language not already in
Γ renders it inconsistent. Notice that if
Γ is maximally consistent then
Γ ⊢ θ if and
only if θ is in Γ.

Theorem 13. The Lindenbaum Lemma.Let Γ be any consistent set of formulas of L1K=. Then there is a set Γ′ of formulas of L1K= such that Γ⊆Γ′ and Γ′ is maximally consistent.

Proof:Although this theorem holds in general, we assume here that the setKof non-logical terminology is either finite or denumerably infinite (i.e., the size of the natural numbers, usually called ℵ_{0}). It follows that there is an enumeration θ_{0}, θ_{1}, … of the formulas of L1K=, such that every formula of L1K= eventually occurs in the list. Define a sequence of sets of formulas, by recursion, as follows: Γ_{0}is Γ; for each natural numbern, if Γ_{n}, θ_{n}is consistent, then let Γ_{n}_{+1}= Γ_{n}, θ_{n}. Otherwise, let Γ_{n}_{+1}= Γ_{n}. Let Γ′ be the union of all of the sets Γ_{n}. Intuitively, the idea is to go through the formulas of L1K=, throwing each one into Γ′ if doing so produces a consistent set. Notice that each Γ_{n}is consistent. Suppose that Γ′ is inconsistent. Then there is a formula θ such that Γ′ ⊢ θ and Γ′ ⊢ ¬θ. By Theorem 9 and Weakening (Theorem 8), there is finite subset Γ″ of Γ′ such that Γ″ ⊢ θ and Γ″ ⊢ ¬θ. Because Γ″ is finite, there is a natural numbernsuch that every member of Γ″ is in Γ_{n}. So, by Weakening again, Γ_{n}⊢ θ and Γ_{n}⊢ ¬θ. So Γ_{n}is inconsistent, which contradicts the construction. So Γ′ is consistent. Now suppose that a formula θ is not in Γ′. We have to show that Γ′, θ is inconsistent. The formula θ must occur in the aforementioned list of formulas; say that θ is θ_{m}. Since θ_{m}is not in Γ′, then it is not in Γ_{m}_{+1}. This happens only if Γ_{m}, θ_{m}is inconsistent. So a pair of contradictory opposites can be deduced from Γ_{m},θ_{m}. By Weakening, a pair of contradictory opposites can be deduced from Γ′, θ_{m}. So Γ′, θ_{m}is inconsistent. Thus, Γ′ is maximally consistent.

Notice that this proof uses a principle corresponding to the law
of excluded middle. In the construction of
Γ′,
we assumed that, at each stage, either
Γ_{n}
is consistent or it is
not. Intuitionists, who demur from excluded middle, do not accept the
Lindenbaum lemma.

## 4. Semantics

Let *K* be a set of non-logical terminology. An
*interpretation* for the language
L1*K*=
is a structure *M* =
<*d*,*I*>, where *d* is a non-empty set,
called the *domain-of-discourse*, or simply the
*domain*, of the interpretation, and *I* is an
*interpretation function*. Informally, the domain is what we
interpret the language
L1*K*= to be
about. It is what the variables range over. The interpretation
function assigns appropriate extensions to the non-logical terms. In
particular,

Ifcis a constant inK, thenI(c) is a member of the domaind.

Thus we assume that every constant denotes something. Systems where
this is not assumed are called *free logics* (see the entry
on free logic). Continuing,

If

P^{0}is a zero-place predicate letter inK, thenI(P) is a truth value, either truth or falsehood.If

Q^{1}is a one-place predicate letter inK, thenI(Q) is a subset ofd. Intuitively,I(Q) is the set of members of the domain that the predicateQholds of. IfQrepresents “red”, thenI(Q) is the set of red members of the domain.If

R^{2}is a two-place predicate letter inK, thenI(R) is a set of ordered pairs of members ofd. Intuitively,I(R) is the set of pairs of members of the domain that the relationRholds between. IfRrepresents “love”, thenI(R) is the set of pairs <a,b> such thataandbare the members of the domain for whichalovesb.In general, if

Sis an^{n}n-place predicate letter inK, thenI(S) is a set of orderedn-tuples of members ofd.

Define *s* to be a *variable-assignment*, or simply an
*assignment*, on an interpretation *M*, if *s*
is a function from the variables to the domain *d* of
*M*. The role of variable-assignments is to assign denotations
to the *free* variables of open formulas. (In a sense, the
quantifiers determine the “meaning” of the bound variables.) Logical
systems that dispense with free variables do not need
variable-assignments, but some other device is employed.

Let *t* be a term of
L1*K*=.
We define the *denotation* of *t* in *M* under
*s*, in terms of the interpretation function and
variable-assignment:

Ifcis a constant, thenD_{M,s}(c) isI(c), and ifvis a variable, thenD_{M,s}(v) iss(v).

That is, the interpretation *M* assigns denotations to the
constants, while the variable-assignment assigns denotations to the
(free) variables. If the language contained function symbols, the
denotation function would be defined by recursion.

We now define a relation of *satisfaction* between
interpretations, variable-assignments, and formulas of
L1*K*=. If φ is a formula of
L1*K*=, *M* is an interpretation for
L1*K*=, and *s* is a
variable-assignment on *M*, then we write
*M*,*s* ⊨ φ for
*M* *satisfies*
φ *under the assignment* *s*. The
idea is that
*M*,*s* ⊨ φ is
an analogue of “φ comes out true when interpreted as in
*M* via *s*”.

We proceed by recursion on the complexity of the formulas of
L1*K*=.

Ift_{1}andt_{2}are terms, thenM,s⊨t_{1}=t_{2}if and only ifD_{M,s}(t_{1}) is the same asD_{M,s}(t_{2}).

This is about as straightforward as it gets. An identity
*t*_{1}=*t*_{2} comes out true if and
only if the terms *t*_{1} and *t*_{2}
denote the same thing.

IfP^{0}is a zero-place predicate letter inK, thenM,s⊨Pif and only ifI(P) is truth.If

Sis an^{n}n-place predicate letter inKandt_{1}, … ,t_{n}are terms, thenM,s⊨St_{1}…t_{n}if and only if then-tuple <D_{M,s}(t_{1}), … ,D_{M,s}(t_{n})> is inI(S).

This takes care of the atomic formulas. We now proceed to the compound formulas of the language, more or less following the meanings of the English counterparts of the logical terminology.

M,s⊨ ¬θ if and only if it is not the case thatM,s⊨ θ.

M,s⊨ (θ&ψ) if and only if bothM,s⊨ θ andM,s⊨ ψ.

M,s⊨ (θ∨ψ) if and only if eitherM,s⊨ θ orM,s⊨ ψ.

M,s⊨ (θ→ψ) if and only if either it is not the case thatM,s⊨ θ, orM,s⊨ ψ.

M,s⊨ ∀vθ if and only ifM,s′ ⊨ θ, for every assignments′ that agrees withsexcept possibly at the variablev.

The idea here is that
∀*v*θ comes out true
if and only if
θ comes out true no matter what is
assigned to the variable *v*. The final clause is similar.

M,s⊨ ∃vθ if and only ifM,s′ ⊨ θ, for some assignments′ that agrees withsexcept possibly at the variablev.

So ∃*v*θ comes out
true if there is an assignment to *v* that makes
θ true.

Theorem 6, unique readability, assures us that this definition is coherent. At each stage in breaking down a formula, there is exactly one clause to be applied, and so we never get contradictory verdicts concerning satisfaction.

As indicated, the role of variable-assignments is to give denotations to the free variables. We now show that variable-assignments play no other role.

Theorem 14.For any formula θ, ifs_{1}ands_{2}agree on the free variables in θ, thenM,s_{1}⊨ θ if and only ifM,s_{2}⊨ θ.

Proof:We proceed by induction on the complexity of the formula θ. The theorem clearly holds if θ is atomic, since in those cases only the values of the variable-assignments at the variables in θ figure in the definition. Assume, then, that the theorem holds for all formulas less complex than θ. And suppose thats_{1}ands_{2}agree on the free variables of θ. Assume, first, that θ is a negation, ¬ψ. Then, by the induction hypothesis,M,s_{1}⊨ ψ if and only ifM,s_{2}⊨ ψ. So, by the clause for negation,M,s_{1}⊨ ¬ψ if and only ifM,s_{2}⊨ ¬ψ. The cases where the main connective in θ is binary are also straightforward. Suppose that θ is ∃vψ, and thatM,s_{1}⊨ ∃vψ. Then there is an assignments_{1}′ that agrees withs_{1}except possibly atvsuch thatM,s_{1}′ ⊨ ψ. Lets_{2}′ be the assignment that agrees withs_{2}on the free variables not in ψ and agrees withs_{1}′ on the others. Then, by the induction hypothesis,M,s_{2}′ ⊨ ψ. Notice thats_{2}′ agrees withs_{2}on every variable except possiblyv. SoM,s_{2}⊨ ∃vψ. The converse is the same, and the case where θ begins with a universal quantifier is similar.

Recall that a sentence is a formula with no free variables. So by
Theorem 14, if θ is a sentence, and
*s*_{1}, *s*_{2}, are any two
variable-assignments, then
*M*,*s*_{1} ⊨ θ
if and only if
*M*,*s*_{2} ⊨ θ.
So we can just write
*M* ⊨ θ if
*M*,*s* ⊨ θ for
some, or all, variable-assignments *s*.

Suppose that
*K*′⊆*K*
are two sets of non-logical terms. If
*M* = <*d*,*I*> is an interpretation of
L1*K*=, then we define the
*restriction* of *M* to
L1*K*′ be the
interpretation
*M*′=<*d*,*I*′>
such that *I*′ is the restriction of
*I* to
*K*′. That is, *M*
and
*M*′ have the same domain and agree on
the non-logical terminology in
*K*′. A
straightforward induction establishes the following:

Theorem 15. IfM′ is the restriction ofMto L1K′, then for every formula θ of L1K′, ifsis any variable-assignment,M,s⊨ θ if and only ifM′,s⊨ θ.

Theorem 16.If two interpretationsM_{1},M_{2}have the same domain and agree on the non-logical terminology of a formula θ, then ifsis any variable-assignment,M_{1},s⊨ θ if and only ifM_{2},s⊨ θ.

In short, the satisfaction of a formula θ only depends on the domain of discourse, the interpretation of the non-logical terminology in θ, and the assignments to the free variables in θ.

We say that an argument
<Γ,θ>
is *semantically valid*, or just *valid*, written
Γ ⊨ θ,
if for every interpretation
*M* of the language and any variable-assignment *s*
on *M*, if
*M*,*s* ⊨ ψ,
for every member ψ of Γ,
then *M*,*s* ⊨ θ. If
Γ ⊨ θ, we
also say that
θ is a *logical
consequence*, or *semantic consequence*, or
*model-theoretic consequence* of
Γ. The
definition corresponds to the informal idea that an argument is valid
if it is not possible for its premises to all be true and its
conclusion false. Our definition of logical consequence also
sanctions the common thesis that a valid argument is
truth-preserving--to the extent that satisfaction represents
truth. Officially, an argument in L1*K*=
is valid if its conclusion comes out true under every interpretation
of the language in which the premises are true. Validity is the
model-theoretic counterpart to deducibility.

A formula
θ is *logically true*, or
*valid*, if
*M*,*s* ⊨ θ,
for every interpretation *M* and assignment *s*. A
formula is logically true if and only if it is a consequence of the
empty set. If
θ is logically true, then for any set
Γ
of formulas,
Γ ⊨ θ.
Logical truth is the model-theoretic counterpart of theoremhood.

A formula θ is *satisfiable* if there is
an interpretation *M* and a variable-assignment *s* on
*M* such that
*M*,*s* ⊨ θ.
That is, θ is satisfiable if
there is an interpretation and assignment that satisfies it. A set
Γ of formulas is satisfiable if there is an
interpretation *M* and a variable-assignment *s* on
*M* such that
*M*,*s* ⊨ θ,
for every formula
θ in
Γ. If
Γ is a set of sentences and
if *M* ⊨ θ for each
sentence
θ in Γ, then we say
that *M* is a *model of*
Γ. So a
set of sentences is satisfiable if it has a model. Satisfiability is
the model-theoretic counterpart to consistency.

Notice that
Γ ⊨ θ
if and only if the set
Γ,¬θ is not satisfiable. It
follows that if a set
Γ is not satisfiable, then
if
θ is any formula,
Γ ⊨ θ.
This is a model-theoretic counterpart to *ex falso quodlibet* (see
Theorem 10). We have the following, as an analogue to Theorem 12:

Theorem 17. Let Γ be a set of formulas. The following are equivalent: (a) Γ is satisfiable; (b) there is no formula θ such that both Γ ⊨ θ and Γ ⊨ ¬θ; (c) there is some formula ψ such that it is not the case that Γ ⊨ ψ.

Proof:(a)⇒(b): Suppose that Γ is satisfiable and let θ be any formula. There is an interpretationMand assignmentssuch thatM,s⊨ ψ for every member ψ of Γ. By the clause for negations, we cannot have bothM,s⊨ θ andM,s⊨ ¬θ. So either <Γ,θ> is not valid or else <Γ,¬θ> is not valid. (b)⇒(c): This is immediate. (c)⇒(a): Suppose that it is not the case that Γ ⊨ ψ. Then there is an interpretationMand an assignmentssuch thatM,s⊨ θ, for every formula θ in Γ and it is not the case thatM,s⊨ ψ. A fortiori,M,ssatisfies every member of Γ, and so Γ is satisfiable.

## 5. Meta-theory

We now present some results that relate the deductive notions to their
model-theoretic counterparts. The first one is probably the most
straightforward. We motivated both the various rules of the deductive
system *D* and the various clauses in the definition of
satisfaction in terms of the meaning of the English counterparts to
the logical terminology (more or less, with the same simplifications
in both cases). So one would expect that an argument is deducible, or
deductively valid, only if it is semantically valid.

Theorem 18. Soundness.For any formula θ and set Γ of formulas, if Γ ⊢_{D}θ, then Γ ⊨ θ.

Proof:We proceed by induction on the number of clauses used to establish Γ ⊢ θ. So letnbe a natural number, and assume that the theorem holds for any argument established as deductively valid with fewer thannsteps. And suppose that Γ ⊢ θ was established using exactlynsteps. If the last rule applied was (=I) then θ is a formula in the formt=t, and so θ is logically true. A fortiori, Γ ⊨ θ. If the last rule applied was (As), then θ is a member of Γ, and so of course any interpretation and assignment that satisfies every member of Γ also satisfies θ. Suppose the last rule applied is (&I). So θ has the form (φ&ψ), and we have Γ_{1}⊢ φ and Γ_{2}⊢ ψ, with Γ = Γ_{1}, Γ_{2}. The induction hypothesis gives us Γ_{1}⊨ φ and Γ_{2}⊨ ψ. Suppose thatM,ssatisfies every member of Γ. ThenM,ssatisfies every member of Γ_{1}, and soM,ssatisfies φ. Similarly,M,ssatisfies every member of Γ_{2}, and soM,ssatisfies ψ. Thus, by the clause for “&” in the definition of satisfaction,M,ssatisfies θ. So Γ ⊨ θ. Suppose the last clause applied was (∃E). So we have Γ_{1}⊢ ∃vψ and Γ_{2}, ψ ⊢ θ, where Γ = Γ_{1}, Γ_{2}, andvdoes not occur free in ψ, nor in any member of Γ_{2}. By the induction hypothesis, we have Γ_{1}⊨ ∃vψ and Γ_{2}, ψ ⊨ θ. LetMbe an interpretation andsan assignment such thatM,ssatisfies every member of Γ. ThenM,ssatisfies every member of Γ_{1}, and soM,s⊨ ∃vψ. So there is an assignments′ that agrees withson every variable except possiblyvsuch thatM,s′ ⊨ ψ. We have thatM,ssatisfies every member of Γ_{2}. Sincevdoes not occur free in any member of Γ_{2}, andsagrees withs′ on everything else, we have thatM,s′ satisfies every member of Γ_{2}, by Theorem 14. SoM,s′ ⊨ θ. Sincevdoes not occur free in θ, andsagrees withson everything else, we have thatM,s⊨ θ, also by Theorem 14. So, in this case, Γ ⊨ θ. Notice the role of the restrictions on (∃E) here. The other cases are about as straightforward.

Corollary 19.Let Γ be a set of formulas. If Γ is satisfiable, then Γ is consistent.

Proof:Suppose that Γ is satisfiable. So letMbe an interpretation andsan assignment such thatM,ssatisfies every member of Γ. Assume that Γ is inconsistent. Then there is a formula θ such that Γ ⊢ θ and Γ ⊢ ¬θ. By soundness (Theorem 18), Γ ⊨ θ and Γ ⊨ ¬θ. So we have thatM,s⊨ θ andM,s⊨ ¬θ. But this is impossible, given the clause for negation in the definition of satisfaction.

Even though the deductive system *D* and the model-theoretic
semantics were developed with the meanings of the logical terminology
in mind, one should not automatically expect the converse to
soundness (or Corollary 19) to hold. For all we know so far, we may
not have included enough rules of inference to deduce every valid
argument. The converses to soundness and Corollary 19 are among the
most interesting results in contemporary mathematical logic. We begin
with the latter.

Theorem 20. Completeness. Gödel [1930].Let Γ be a set of formulas. If Γ is consistent, then Γ is satisfiable.

Proof:The proof of completeness is rather complex. We only sketch it here. Let Γ be a consistent set of formulas of L1K=. Again, we assume for simplicity that the setKof non-logical terminology is either finite or countably infinite (although the theorem holds even ifKis uncountable). The task at hand is to find an interpretationMand a variable-assignmentsonM, such thatM,ssatisfies every member of Γ. Consider the language obtained from L1K= by adding a denumerably infinite stock of new individual constantsc_{0},c_{1}, … We stipulate that the constants,c_{0},c_{1}, … , are all different from each other and none of them occur inK. One interesting feature of this construction, due to Leon Henkin, is that we build an interpretation of the language from the language itself, using some of the constants as members of the domain of discourse. Let θ_{0}, θ_{1}, … be an enumeration of the formulas of the expanded language, so that each formula occurs in the list eventually. Letxbe any variable, and define a sequence Γ_{0}, Γ_{1}, … of sets of formulas (of the expanded language) by recursion as follows: Γ_{0}= Γ; and Γ_{n}_{+1}= Γ_{n},(∃xθ_{n}→ θ_{n}(x|c_{i})), wherec_{i}is the first constant in the above list that does not occur in θ_{n}or in any member of Γ_{n}. The underlying idea here is that if ∃xθ_{n}is true, thenc_{i}is to be one suchx. Let Γ be the union of the sets Γ_{n}.I sketch a proof that Γ′ is consistent. Suppose that Γ′ is inconsistent. By Theorem 9, there is a finite subset of Γ that is inconsistent, and so one of the sets Γ

_{m}is inconsistent. By hypothesis, Γ_{0}= Γ is consistent. Letnbe the smallest number such that Γ_{n}is consistent, but Γ_{n}_{+1}= Γ_{n},(∃xθ_{n}→ θ_{n}(x|c_{i})) is inconsistent. By (¬I), we have that(1) Γ_{n}⊢ ¬(∃xθ_{n}→ θ_{n}(x|c_{i})).By

ex falso quodlibet(Theorem 10), Γ_{n}, ¬∃xθ_{n}, ∃xθ_{n}⊢ θ_{n}(x|c_{i}). So by (→I), Γ_{n}, ¬∃xθ_{n}⊢ (∃xθ_{n}→ θ_{n}(x|c_{i})). From this and (1), we have Γ_{n}⊢ ¬¬∃xθ_{n}, by (¬I), and by (DNE) we have(2) Γ_{n}⊢ ∃xθ_{n}.By (As), Γ

_{n}, θ_{n}(x|c_{i}), ∃xθ_{n}⊢ θ_{n}(x|c_{i}). So by (→I), Γ_{n}, θ_{n}(x|c_{i}) ⊢ (∃xθ_{n}→ θ_{n}(x|c_{i})). From this and (1), we have Γ_{n}⊢ ¬θ_{n}(x|c_{i}), by (¬I). Letvbe a variable that does not occur (free or bound) in θ_{n}or in any member of Γ_{n}. By uniform substitution ofvforc_{i}, we can turn the derivation of Γ_{n}⊢ ¬θ_{n}(x|c_{i}) into Γ_{n}⊢ ¬θ_{n}(x|v). By (∀I), we have(3) Γ_{n}⊢ ∀v¬θ_{n}(x|v).By (As) we have {∀

v¬θ_{n}(x|v),θ_{n}} ⊢ θ_{n}and by (∀E) we have {∀v¬θ_{n}(x|v), θ_{n}} ⊢ ¬θ_{n}. So {∀v¬θ_{n}(x|v), θ_{n}} is inconsistent. Let φ be any sentence of the language (so that φ has no free variables). Byex falso quodlibet(Theorem 10), we have that {∀v¬θ_{n}(x|v),θ_{n}} ⊢ φ and {∀v¬θ_{n}(x|v), θ_{n}} ⊢ ¬φ. So with (2), we have that Γ_{n}, ∀v¬θ_{n}(x|v) ⊢ φ and Γ_{n}, ∀v¬θ_{n}(x|v) ⊢ ¬φ, by (∃E). By Cut (Theorem 11), Γ_{n}⊢ φ and Γ_{n}⊢ ¬φ. So Γ_{n}is inconsistent, contradicting the assumption. So Γ′ is consistent.Applying the Lindenbaum Lemma (Theorem 13), let Γ″ be a maximally consistent set of sentences (of the expanded language) that contains Γ′. So, of course, Γ″ contains Γ. We can now define an interpretation

M, and a variable-assignmentsonM, such thatM,ssatisfies every member of Γ″.If we did not have a sign for identity in the language, we would let the domain of

Mbe the collection of new constants {c_{0},c_{1}, … }. But as it is, there may be a sentence in the formc_{i}=c_{j}, withi≠j, in Γ″. If so, we cannot have bothc_{i}andc_{j}in the domain of the interpretation (as they are distinct constants). So we define the domaindofMto be the set {c_{i}| there is noj<isuch thatc_{i}=c_{j}is in Γ″}. In other words, a constantc_{i}is in the domain ofMif Γ″ does not declare it to be identical to an earlier constant in the list. Notice that for each new constantc_{i}, there is exactly onej≤isuch thatc_{j}is indand the sentencec_{i}=c_{j}is in Γ″.We now define the interpretation function

I. Letabe any constant in the expanded language. By (=I) and (∃I), Γ″ ⊢ ∃xx=a, and so ∃xx=a∈ Γ″. By the construction of Γ′, there is a sentence in the form (∃xx=a→c_{i}=a) in Γ″. We have thatc_{i}=ais in Γ″. As above, there is exactly onec_{j}indsuch thatc_{i}=c_{j}is in Γ″. LetI(a)=c_{j}. Notice that ifc_{i}is a constant in the domaind, thenI(c_{i})=c_{i}. That is eachc_{i}inddenotes itself.Let

Pbe a zero-place predicate letter inK. ThenI(P) is truth ifPis in Γ″ andI(P) is falsehood otherwise. LetQbe a one-place predicate letter inK. ThenI(Q) is the set of constants {c_{i}|c_{i}is indand the formulaQcis in Γ″}. LetRbe a binary predicate letter inK. ThenI(R) is the set of pairs of constants {<c_{i},c_{j}> |c_{i}is ind,c_{j}is ind, and the formulaRc_{i}c_{j}is in Γ″}. Three-place predicates, etc. are interpreted similarly. In effect,Iinterprets the non-logical terminology as they are in Γ″.The variable-assignment is similar. If

vis a variable, thens(v)=c_{i}, wherec_{i}is the first constant indsuch thatc_{i}=vis in Γ″.The final item in this proof is a tedious lemma that for every formula θ in the expanded language,

M,s⊨ θ if and only if θ is in Γ″. This proceeds by induction on the complexity of θ. The case where θ is atomic follows from the definitions ofM(i.e., the domaindand the interpretation functionI) and the variable-assignments. The other cases follow from the various clauses in the definition of satisfaction.Since Γ⊆Γ″, we have that

M,ssatisfies every member of Γ. By Theorem 15, the restriction ofMto the original language L1K= andsalso satisfies every member of Γ. Thus Γ is satisfiable.

A converse to Soundness (Theorem 18) is a straightforward corollary:

Theorem 21.For any formula θ and set Γ of formulas, if Γ ⊨ θ, then Γ ⊢_{D}θ.

Proof:Suppose that Γ ⊨ θ. Then there is no interpretationMand assignmentssuch thatM,ssatisfies every member of Γ but does not satisfy θ. So the set Γ,¬θ is not satisfiable. By Completeness (Theorem 20), Γ,¬θ is inconsistent. So there is a formula φ such that Γ,¬θ ⊢ φ and Γ,¬θ ⊢ ¬φ. By (¬I), Γ ⊢ ¬¬θ, and by (DNE) Γ ⊢ θ.

Our next item is a corollary of Theorem 9, Soundness (Theorem 18), and Completeness:

Corollary 22. Compactness.A set Γ of formulas is satisfiable if and only if every finite subset of Γ is satisfiable.

Proof:IfM,ssatisfies every member of Γ, thenM,ssatisfies every member of each finite subset of Γ. For the converse, suppose that Γ is not satisfiable. Then we show that some finite subset of Γ is not satisfiable. By Completeness (Theorem 20), Γ is inconsistent. By Theorem 9 (and Weakening), there is a finite subset Γ′⊆Γ such that Γ′ is inconsistent. By Corollary 19, Γ′ is not satisfiable.

Soundness and completeness together entail that an argument is deducible if and only if it is valid, and a set of formulas is consistent if and only if it is satisfiable. So we can go back and forth between model-theoretic and proof-theoretic notions, transferring properties of one to the other. Compactness holds in the model theory because all derivations use only a finite number of premises.

Recall that in the proof of Completeness (Theorem 20), we made the
simplifying assumption that the set *K* of non-logical
constants is either finite or denumerably infinite. The
interpretation we produced was itself either finite or denumerably
infinite. Thus, we have the following:

Corollary 23. Löwenheim-Skolem Theorem.Let Γ be a satisfiable set of sentences of the language L1K=. If Γ is either finite or denumerably infinite, then Γ has a model whose domain is either finite or denumerably infinite.

In general, let
Γ be a satisfiable set of
sentences of
L1*K*=, and let
κ be the larger of the size of
Γ and denumerably infinite. Then
Γ has a model whose domain is at most size
κ.

There is a stronger version of Corollary 23. Let
*M*_{1}=<*d*_{1},*I*_{1}>
and
*M*_{2}=<*d*_{2},*I*_{2}>
be interpretations of the language
L1*K*=. Define *M*_{1} to be
a *submodel* of *M*_{2} if
*d*_{1}
⊆
*d*_{2},
*I*_{1}(*c*) = *I*_{2}(*c*)
for each constant *c*, and
*I*_{1} is the restriction of *I*_{2}
to *d*_{1}. For example, if *R* is a binary
relation letter in *K*, then for all *a*,*b*
in *d*_{1}, the pair <*a*,*b*>
is in *I*_{1}(*R*) if and only if
<*a*,*b*> is in
*I*_{2}(*R*). If we had included function
letters among the non-logical terminology, we would also require
that *d*_{1} be closed under their interpretations
in *M*_{2}. Notice that if *M*_{1} is
a submodel of *M*_{2}, then any variable-assignment
on *M*_{1} is also a variable-assignment on
*M*_{2}.

Say that two interpretations
*M*_{1}=<*d*_{1},*I*_{1}>,
*M*_{2}=<*d*_{2},*I*_{2}>
are *equivalent* if one of them is a submodel
of the other, and for any formula of the language and any
variable-assignment *s* on the submodel,
*M*_{1},*s* ⊨ θ
if and only if
*M*_{2},*s* ⊨ θ.
Notice that if two interpretations are equivalent, then
they satisfy the same sentences.

Theorem 25. Downward Löwenheim-Skolem Theorem.LetM= <d,I> be an interpretation of the language L1K=. Letd_{1}be any subset ofd, and let κ be the maximum of the size ofK, the size ofd_{1}, and denumerably infinite. Then there is a submodelM′ = <d′,I′> ofMsuch that (1)d′ is not larger than κ, and (2)MandM′ are equivalent. In particular, if the setKof non-logical terminology is either finite or denumerably infinite, then any interpretation has an equivalent submodel whose domain is either finite or denumerably infinite.

Proof:Like completeness, this proof is complex, and we rest content with a sketch. The downward Löwenheim-Skolem theorem invokes the axiom of choice, and indeed, is equivalent to the axiom of choice (see the entry on the axiom of choice). So letCbe a choice function on the powerset ofd, so that for each non-empty subsete⊆d,C(e) is a member ofe. We stipulate that ifeis the empty set, thenC(e) isC(d).Let

sbe a variable-assignment onM, let θ be a formula of L1K=, and letvbe a variable. Define thev-witness ofθover s, writtenw_{v}(θ,s), as follows: Letqbe the set of all elementsc∈dsuch that there is a variable-assignments′ onMthat agrees withson every variable except possiblyv, such thatM,s′ ⊨ θ, ands′(v)=c. Thenw_{v}(θ,s) =C(q). Notice that ifM,s⊨ ∃vθ, thenqis the set of elements of the domain that can go forvin θ. Indeed,M,s⊨ ∃vθ if and only ifqis non-empty. So ifM,s⊨ ∃vθ, thenw_{v}(θ,s) (i.e.,C(q)) is a chosen element of the domain that can go forvin θ. In a sense, it is a “witness” that verifiesM,s⊨ ∃vθ.If

eis a non-empty subset of the domaind, then define a variable-assignmentsto be ane-assignmentif for all variablesu,s(u) is ine. That is,sis ane-assignment ifsassigns an element ofeto each variable. Definesk(e), theSkolem-hullofe, to be the set:e∪ {w_{v}(θ,s) | θ is a formula in L1K=,vis a variable, andsis ane-assignment}.That is, the Skolem-Hull of

eis the setetogether with everyv-witness of every formula over everye-assignment. Roughly, the idea is to start witheand then throw in enough elements to make each existentially quantified formula true. But we cannot rest content with the Skolem-hull, however. Once we throw the “witnesses” into the domain, we need to deal withsk(e) assignments. In effect, we need a set which is its own Skolem-hull, and also contains the given subsetd_{1}.We define a sequence of non-empty sets

e_{0},e_{1}, … as follows: if the given subsetd_{1}ofdis empty and there are no constants inK, then lete_{0}beC(d), the choice function applied to the entire domain; otherwise lete_{0}be the union ofd_{1}and the denotations underIof the constants inK. For each natural numbern,e_{n}_{+1}issk(e_{n}). Finally, letd′ be the union of the setse_{n}, and letI′ be the restriction ofItod′. Our interpretation isM′ = <d′,I′>.Clearly,

d_{1}is a subset ofd′, and soM′ is a submodel ofM. Let κ be the maximum of the size ofK, the size ofd_{1}, and denumerably infinite. A calculation reveals that the size ofd′ is at most κ, based on the fact that there are at most κ-many formulas, and thus, at most κ-many witnesses at each stage. Notice, incidentally, that this calculation relies on the fact that a denumerable union of sets of size at most κ is itself at most κ. This also relies on the axiom of choice.The final item is to show that

M′ is equivalent toM: For every formula θ and every variable-assignmentsonM′,M,s⊨ θ if and only ifM′,s⊨ θ.We proceed by induction on the complexity of θ. If θ is atomic, then the definition of satisfaction entails the equivalence. So let θ be non-atomic, and assume that

M,s⊨ ψ if and only ifM′,s⊨ ψ, for all assignmentssonM′ and all formulas ψ less complex than θ. Letsbe any such assignment. If the main connective of θ is the negation sign or a binary connective, then the induction hypothesis entails thatM,s⊨ θ if and only ifM′,s⊨ θ. The remaining cases are those in which θ begins with a quantifier, i.e., θ is either ∃vψ or ∀vψ. Suppose thatM′,s⊨ ∃vψ. Then there is a variable-assignments′ that agrees withsexcept possibly atvsuch thatM′,s′ ⊨ ψ. By the induction hypothesis,M,s′ ⊨ ψ and soM,s⊨ ∃vψ. The converse is a bit tricky, and amounts to showing that the Skolem-hull ofd′ isd′. Assume thatM,s⊨ ∃vψ. We are given thatsis a variable-assignment ond′. Since there are only finitely many free-variables in ψ, letnbe any natural number such that for all variablesuthat occur free in ψ,s(u) is ine_{n}. Lets_{1}be ane_{n}-assignment that agrees withson all of the free variables in ψ. Then, by Theorem 14,M,s_{1}⊨ ∃vψ. Letcbew_{v}(θ,s_{1}), thev-witness ofθovers_{1}. Notice thatcis ine_{n+1}and socis ind′. Lets_{1}′ agree withs_{1}, except possibly atv, and lets_{1}′(v)=c. Sos_{1}′ is a variable-assignment onM′. By the definition of the witness function,M,s_{1}′ ⊨ ψ. By the induction hypothesis,M′,s_{1}′ ⊨ ψ, and soM′,s_{1}⊨ ∃vψ. By Theorem 14,M′,s⊨ ∃vψ. The final case, where θ has the form ∀vψ, is similar.

Another corollary to Compactness (Corollary 22) is the opposite of the Löwenheim-Skolem theorem:

Theorem 26. Upward Löwenheim-Skolem Theorem.Let Γ be any set of formulas of L1K=, such that for each natural numbern, there is an interpretationM_{n}= <d_{n},I_{n}>, and an assignments_{n}onM_{n}, such thatd_{n}has at leastnelements, andM_{n},s_{n}satisfies every member of Γ. In other words, Γ is satisfiable and there is no finite upper bound to the size of the interpretations that satisfy every member of Γ. Then for any infinite cardinal κ, there is an interpretationM=<d,I> and assignmentsonM, such that the size ofdisat leastκ andM,ssatisfies every member of Γ. In particular, if Γ is a set of sentences, then it has arbitrarily large models.

Proof:Add a collection of new constants {c_{α}| α<κ}, of size κ, to the language, so that ifcis a constant inK, thenc_{α}is different fromc, and if α<β<κ, thenc_{α}is a different constant thanc_{β}. Consider the set of formulas Γ′ consisting of Γ together with the set {¬c_{α}=c_{β}| α≠β}. That is, Γ′ consists of Γ together with statements to the effect that any two different new constants denote different objects. Let Γ″ be any finite subset of Γ′, and letmbe the number of new constants that occur in Γ″. Then expand the interpretationM_{m}to an interpretationM_{m}′ of the new language, by interpreting each of the new constants in Γ″ as a different member of the domaind_{m}. By hypothesis, there are enough members ofd_{m}to do this. One can interpret the other new constants at will. SoM_{m}is a restriction ofM_{m}′. By hypothesis (and Theorem 15),M′_{m},s_{m}satisfies every member of Γ. AlsoM′_{m},s_{m}satisfies the members of {¬c_{α}=c_{β}| α≠β} that are in Γ″. SoM′_{m},s_{m}satisfies every member of Γ″. By compactness, there is an interpretationM= <d,I> and an assignmentsonMsuch thatM,ssatisfies every member of Γ′. Since Γ′ contains every member of {¬c_{α}=c_{β}| α≠β}, the domaindofMmust be of size at least κ, since each of the new constants must have a different denotation. By Theorem 15, the restriction ofMto the original language L1K= satisfies every member of Γ, with the variable-assignments.

Combined, the proofs of the downward and upward Löwenheim-Skolem
theorems show that for any satisfiable set
Γ of sentences, if there is no finite bound on
the models of
Γ, then for any infinite cardinal
κ,
there is a model of
Γ whose domain has size
*exactly*
κ. Moreover, if *M* is any interpretation
whose domain is infinite, then for any infinite cardinal
κ,
there is an interpretation
*M*′ whose domain has
size exactly
κ such that
*M* and
*M*′ are equivalent.

These results indicate a weakness in the expressive resources of
first-order languages like
L1*K*=. No
satisfiable set of sentences can guarantee that its models are all
denumerably infinite, nor can any satisfiable set of sentences
guarantee that its models are uncountable. So in a sense, first-order
languages cannot express the notion of “denumerably infinite”, at
least not in the model theory. (See the entry on
second-order and higher-order logic.)

Let *A* be any set of sentences in a first-order language
L1*K*=,
where *K* includes
terminology for arithmetic, and assume that every member of
*A* is true of the natural numbers. We can even let *A*
be the set of all sentences in
L1*K*=
that are true of the natural
numbers. Then *A* has uncountable models, indeed models of
any infinite cardinality. Such interpretations are among those that are sometimes
called *unintended*, or *non-standard* models of
arithmetic. Let *B* be any set of first-order sentences that
are true of the real numbers, and let *C* be any first-order
axiomatization of set theory. Then if *B* and *C* are
satisfiable (in infinite interpretations), then each of them has
denumerably infinite models. That is, any first-order, satisfiable
set theory or theory of the real numbers, has (unintended) models
the size of the natural numbers. This is despite the fact that a
sentence (seemingly) stating that the universe is uncountable is
provable in most set-theories. This situation, known as the
*Skolem paradox*, has generated much discussion, but we must
refer the reader elsewhere for a sample of it (see the entry on
Skolem's paradox and
Shapiro 1996).

## Bibliography

### Cited Works

- Anderson, A. and N. Belnap [1975],
*Entailment: The logic of relevance and necessity I*, Princeton: Princeton University Press. - Anderson, A. and N. Belnap, and M. Dunn [1992],
*Entailment: The logic of relevance and necessity II*, Princeton: Princeton University Press. - Cook, R. [2002], “Vagueness and mathematical
precision”,
*Mind*, 111: 227-247. - Corcoran, J. [1973], “Gaps between logical theory and
mathematical practice”,
*The methodological unity of science*, ed. by M. Bunge, Dordrecht: D. Reidel, 23-50. - Davidson, D. [1984],
*Inquiries into truth and interpretation*, Oxford: Clarendon Press. - Dummett, M. [2000],
*Elements of intuitionism*, second edition, Oxford: Oxford University Press. - Gödel, K. [1930], “Die Vollständigkeit der Axiome des
logischen Funktionenkalkuls”,
*Montatshefte für Mathematik und Physik 37*, 349-360; translated as “The completeness of the axioms of the functional calculus of logic”, in van Heijenoort [1967], 582-591. - Lycan, W. [1984],
*Logical form in natural language*, Cambridge, MA: The MIT Press. - Montague, R. [1974],
*Formal philosophy*, ed. by R. Thomason, New Haven: Yale University Press. - Priest, G. [2006],
*In contradiction, a study of the transconsistent*, second, revised edition, Oxford: Clarendon Press. - Priest, G. [2006a],
*Doubt truth to be a liar*, Oxford: Clarendon Press. - Quine, W. V. O. [1960],
*Word and object*, Cambridge, MA: The MIT Press. - Quine, W. V. O. [1986],
*Philosophy of logic*, second edition, Englewood Cliffs: Prentice-Hall. - Shapiro, S. [1996],
*The limits of logic: Second-order logic and the Skolem paradox*,*The international research library of philosophy*, Dartmouth Publishing Company, 1996. (An anthology containing many of the significant later papers on the Skolem paradox.) - Shapiro, S. [1998], “Logical consequence: models and
modality”, in
*The philosophy of mathematics today*, edited by M. Schirn, Oxford: Oxford University Press, 131-156. - Tennant, N. [1997],
*The taming of the true*, Oxford: Clarendon Press. - Van Heijenoort, J [1967],
*From Frege to Gödel*, Cambridge, Massachusetts: Harvard University Press. An anthology containing many of the major historical papers on mathematical logic in the early decades of the twentieth century.

### Further Reading

There are many fine textbooks on mathematical logic. A sample follows.- Boolos, G., J. P. Burgess, and R. Jeffrey
[2007],
*Computability and logic*, fifth edition, Cambridge, England: Cambridge University Press. Elementary and intermediate level. - Bergmann, M., J. Moor and J. Nelson [2013],
*The logic book*, sixth edition, New York: McGraw-Hill. Elementary and intermediate level. - Church, A. [1956],
*Introduction to mathematical logic*, Princeton: Princeton University Press. Classic textbook. - Enderton, H. [1972],
*A mathematical introduction to logic*, New York: Academic Press. Textbook in mathematical logic, aimed at a mathematical audience. - Forbes, G. [1994],
*Modern Logic*, Oxford: Oxford University Press. Elementary textbook. - Mendelson, E. [1987],
*Introduction to mathematical logic*, third edition, Princeton: van Nostrand. Intermediate.

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