Philosophy of History

First published Sun Feb 18, 2007; substantive revision Tue Nov 24, 2020

The concept of history plays a fundamental role in human thought. It invokes notions of human agency, change, the role of material circumstances in human affairs, and the putative meaning of historical events. It raises the possibility of “learning from history.” And it suggests the possibility of better understanding ourselves in the present, by understanding the forces, choices, and circumstances that brought us to our current situation. It is therefore unsurprising that philosophers have sometimes turned their attention to efforts to examine history itself and the nature of historical knowledge. These reflections can be grouped together into a body of work called “philosophy of history.” This work is heterogeneous, comprising analyses and arguments of idealists, positivists, logicians, theologians, and others, and moving back and forth over the divides between European and Anglo-American philosophy, and between hermeneutics and positivism.

Given the plurality of voices within the “philosophy of history,” it is impossible to give one definition of the field that suits all these approaches. In fact, it is misleading to imagine that we refer to a single philosophical tradition when we invoke the phrase, “philosophy of history,” because the strands of research characterized here rarely engage in dialogue with each other. Still, we can usefully think of philosophers’ writings about history as clustering around several large questions, involving metaphysics, hermeneutics, epistemology, and ethics: (1) What does history consist of—individual actions, social structures, periods and regions, civilizations, large causal processes, divine intervention? (2) Does history as a whole have meaning, structure, or direction, beyond the individual events and actions that make it up? (3) What is involved in our knowing, representing, and explaining history? (4) To what extent do facts about human history create moral responsibilities for the present generation?

1. History and its representation

What are the intellectual tasks that define the historian’s work? In a sense, this question is best answered on the basis of a careful reading of some good historians. But it will be useful to offer several simple answers to this foundational question as a sort of conceptual map of the nature of historical knowing.

First, historians are interested in providing conceptualizations and factual descriptions of events and circumstances in the past. This effort is an answer to questions like these: “What happened? What was it like? What were some of the circumstances and happenings that took place during this period in the past?” Sometimes this means simply reconstructing a complicated story from scattered historical sources—for example, in constructing a narrative of the Spanish Civil War or attempting to sort out the series of events that culminated in the Detroit race riot / uprising of 1967. But sometimes it means engaging in substantial conceptual work in order to arrive at a vocabulary in terms of which to characterize “what happened.” Concerning the disorders of 1967 in Detroit: was this a riot or an uprising? How did participants and contemporaries think about it?

Second, historians often want to answer “why” questions: “Why did this event occur? What were the conditions and forces that brought it about?” What were the motivations of the participants? This body of questions invites the historian to provide an explanation of the event or pattern he or she describes: the rise of fascism in Spain, the collapse of the Ottoman Empire, the occurrence of ethnic cleansing in Bosnia in 1992 and later. And providing an explanation requires, most basically, an account of the causal mechanisms, background circumstances, and human choices that brought the outcome about. We explain an historical outcome when we identify the social causes, forces, events, and actions that brought it about, or made it more likely.

Third, and related to the previous point, historians are sometimes interested in answering a “how” question: “How did this outcome come to pass? What were the processes through which the outcome occurred?” How did the Prussian Army succeed in defeating the superior French Army in 1870? How did the Polish trade union Solidarity manage to bring about the end of Communist rule in Poland in 1989? Here the pragmatic interest of the historian’s account derives from the antecedent unlikelihood of the event in question: how was this outcome possible? This too is an explanation; but it is an answer to a “how possible” question rather than a “why necessary” question.

Fourth, often historians are interested in piecing together the human meanings and intentions that underlie a given complex series of historical actions. They want to help the reader make sense of the historical events and actions, in terms of the thoughts, motives, and states of mind of the participants. For example: Why did Napoleon III carelessly provoke Prussia into war in 1870? Why did the parties of the far right in Germany gain popular support among German citizens in the 1990s? Why did northern cities in the United States develop such marked patterns of racial segregation after World War II? Answers to questions like these require interpretation of actions, meanings, and intentions—of individual actors and of cultures that characterize whole populations. This aspect of historical thinking is “hermeneutic,” interpretive, and ethnographic.

And, of course, the historian faces an even more basic intellectual task: that of discovering and making sense of the archival and historical information that exists about a given event or time in the past. Historical data do not speak for themselves; archives are incomplete, ambiguous, contradictory, and confusing. The historian needs to interpret individual pieces of evidence, and he or she needs to be able to somehow fit the mass of evidence into a coherent and truthful story. Complex events like the Spanish Civil War present the historian with an ocean of historical traces in repositories and archives all over the world; these collections sometimes reflect specific efforts at concealment by the powerful (for example, Franco’s efforts to conceal all evidence of mass killings of Republicans after the end of fighting); and the historian’s task is to find ways of using this body of evidence to discern some of the truth about the past.

In short, historians conceptualize, describe, contextualize, explain, and interpret events and circumstances of the past. They sketch out ways of representing the complex activities and events of the past; they explain and interpret significant outcomes; and they base their findings on evidence in the present that bears upon facts about the past. Their accounts need to be grounded on the evidence of the available historical record, and their explanations and interpretations require that the historian arrive at hypotheses about social causes and cultural meanings. Historians can turn to the best available theories in the social and behavioral sciences to arrive at theories about causal mechanisms and human behavior; so historical statements depend ultimately upon factual inquiry and theoretical reasoning. Ultimately, the historian’s task is to shed light on the what, why, and how of the past, based on inferences from the evidence of the present.

Three preliminary issues are relevant to almost all discussions of history and the philosophy of history. The first is a set of issues having to do with the "ontology" of history, the kinds of entities, processes, and events that make up the historical past. This topic concerns the entities, forces, and structures that we postulate in describing the historical phenomena, whether the medieval manor or the Weimar Republic, and the theory we have of how these social entities depend upon the actions of the historical actors who embody them. The second issue has to do with the problems of selectivity unavoidable for the historian of any period or epoch. Here we take up the question of how the unavoidable selectivity of historical inquiry in terms of theme, location, scope, and scale influences the nature of historical knowledge. The third issue has to do with the complicated relationship that exists between history, narrative, and collective memory. This topic addresses the point that real human beings make history. And, as Marc Bloch insists (1953), we humans are historical beings, we tell stories about ourselves, and those stories sometimes themselves have major historical consequences. The collective memories and identities of Serb nationalism were a historical fact in the 1990s, and these elements of mythic collective identity led to massive bloodshed, ethnic cleansing, and murder during the violent breakup of Yugoslavia (Judt and Snyder, 2012; Judt, 2006).

1.1 Actors, structures, and causes in history

An important problem for the philosophy of history is how to conceptualize “history” happenings. What are the "objects" of which history consists? Are there social structures or systems that play a role in history? Are there causes at work in the historical process? Or is history simply an concatenation of the actions and mental frameworks of myriad individuals, high and low? If both structures and actors are crucial to understanding history, what is the relationship between them?

Marc Bloch (1953) provided a very simple and penetrating definition of history. History is "man in time". By this he meant that history is the product of human action, creativity, invention, conflict, and interaction. Bloch was skeptical about many other categories commonly used to analyze history—periods, epochs, civilizations, reigns, and centuries. Instead, he advocated for what can be called an "actor-centered" conception of history. If there are structures and systems in history, they depend upon the beliefs, attitudes, and actions of individual actors. If there are causes in history, they likewise depend upon the actions and interactions of human actors within a setting of humanly created institutions and norms. The task of the historian is to reconstruct the meanings, beliefs, values, purposes, constraints, and actions that jointly explain the moments of history, from the meaning of an ancient stele to the causes of the rapid defeat of France in 1940.

This perspective does not diminish the ontological importance of structures, systems, and ideologies in history. It simply forces the historian, like the social scientist, to be attentive to the problem of articulating the relationship that exists between actors and structures. A system of norms, a property system, and a moral ideology of feudal loyalty can all be understood as being both objectively present at a time and place, and being ontologically dependent upon the mental frameworks, actions, and relationships of the individual actors who make up these systems. This problem has been thoroughly discussed in the philosophy of social science under the rubric of "ontological individualism" (Zahle and Collin, 2014). Higher-level social entities are indeed causally powerful in the social world; and they depend entirely for their causal powers on the characteristics of the individual actors who constitute them. This is the requirement of microfoundations: extended social structures and causes depend upon microfoundations at the level of the individuals who constitute them (Little 2017). In particular, we need to have some idea about how individuals have been brought to think and act in the ways required by the structures and ideologies in which they function as adults. On this approach, history is the result of the actions and thoughts of vast numbers of actors, and institutions, structures, and norms are likewise embodied in the actions and mental frameworks of historically situated individuals. Such an approach helps to inoculate us against the error of reification of historical structures, periods, or forces, in favor of a more disaggregated conception of multiple actors and shifting conditions of action. This is the conception to which we are drawn when we understand history along the lines proposed by Bloch.

This orientation brings along with it the importance of analyzing closely the social and natural environment in which actors frame their choices. A historian’s account of the flow of human action eventuating in historical change unavoidably needs to take into account the institutional and situational environment in which these actions take place. Part of the social environment of a period of historical change is the ensemble of institutions that exist more or less stably in the period: property relations, political institutions, family structures, educational practices, religious and moral values. So historical explanations need to be sophisticated in their treatment of institutions, cultures, and practices. It is an important fact that a given period in time possesses a fund of scientific and technical knowledge, a set of social relationships of power, and a level of material productivity. It is also an important fact that knowledge is limited; that coercion exists; and that resources for action are limited. Within these opportunities and limitations, individuals, from leaders to ordinary people, make out their lives and ambitions through action.

Similar microfoundational accounts must be given in support of the idea of "causes in history". Once established, it is reasonably straightforward to see how a social structure such as a property system or an ideology "causes" a historical outcome: by constraining the choices of actors and contributing to their motivations and values in the choices they make, a structure or an ideology influences historically important events like social movements, market crashes, or outbreaks of ethnic violence. Structures influence individual actors, and individual actors collectively constitute structures. This approach gives a basis for judging that such-and-so circumstance “caused” a given historical change; but it also provides an understanding of the way in which this kind of historical cause is embodied and conveyed—through the actions and thoughts of individuals in response to given natural and social circumstances.

Are there large scale causes at work in historical processes? Historians often pose questions like these: “What were some of the causes of the fall of Rome?”, “what were the causes of the rise of fascism?”, or “what were the causes of the Industrial Revolution?”. These kinds of questions presuppose that there were grand causes at work that had grand effects. However, it is more plausible to believe that the causes of some very large and significant historical events are themselves small, granular, gradual, and cumulative. If this is the case, then there is no satisfyingly simple and high-level answer to the question, why did Rome fall? Moreover, astute historians like Bloch and his contemporaries recognized that there is a very large amount of contingency and path dependency in historical change (Pierson, 2004). Historical outcomes are not determined by a few large scale causes; instead, multiple local, contingent, and conjunctural processes and happening jointly come together in the production of the outcome of interest. It is possible, for example, that the collapse of the Roman Empire resulted from a myriad of very different contingencies and organizational features in different parts of the empire. A contingent account of the fall of Rome might refer to logistical difficulties in supplying armies in the German winter, particularly stubborn local resistance in Palestine, administrative decay in Roman Britain, population pressure in Egypt, and a particularly inept series of commanders in Gaul. Without drama, administrative and military collapse ensues. The best we can do sometimes is to identify a swarm of independent, small-scale processes and contingencies that eventually produced the large outcome of interest.

This approach might be called "actor-centered history": we explain a historical moment or event when we have an account of what people thought and believed; what they wanted; and what social, institutional, and environmental conditions framed their choices. It is a view of history that gives close attention to states of knowledge, ideology, and agency, as well as institutions, organizations, and structures, and examines the actions and practices of individuals as they lived their lives within these constraining and enabling circumstances. Further, it emphasizes the contingency and path-dependency of history, and it acknowledges the fact of heterogeneity of institutions, beliefs, and actions across time and place.

1.2 Selectivity and scale in history

Historical research unavoidably requires selectivity in deciding what particular phenomena to emphasize. As Max Weber (1949) notes, there is an infinite depth to historical reality, and therefore it is necessary to select a finite representation of the object of study if we want to approach a problem rigorously. Let us imagine, for example, that a historian is interested in cities and their development over time. This might be pursued as an economic question, a question of regional geography, a question about cultural change, a question about poverty and segregation, a question about municipal governance, or a question about civil disturbances, and so one, for indefinitely many aspects of urban life. One generation of historians may be especially interested in cultural topics, while another generation is preoccupied with the organization of the economy at various points in history. The two orientations lead to very different historical representations of the past. Both inquiries lead to true depictions of the cities in question, but their findings and interpretations are very different. Likewise, the historian needs to make choices about location; is he or she interested in the cities of Britain, the cities of Europe, or all cities in the world? Further, the historian must consider whether to conduct a comparative history of cities, examining similarities and differences in the development of Paris and London; or instead restrict attention to a single case. Simply collecting “historical facts” about cities in the past is not a valid mode of historical inquiry. The question of how historians select and identify their subjects for research is an important one for the philosophy of history, and it has great significance for how we think about “knowing the past”.

Weber’s essays on methodology (1949) provide insight about these questions. Weber emphasizes the role that the scholar’s values play in his or her selection of a subject matter and a conceptual framework. So it is always open to historians of later generations to reevaluate prior interpretations of various aspects and periods of history. There is no general or comprehensive approach to defining the historical; there is only the possibility of a series of selective and value-guided approaches to defining specific aspects of history. We are always at liberty to bring forward new perspectives and new aspects of the problem, and to arrive at new insights about how the phenomena hang together when characterized in these new ways. This inherent selectivity of historical knowledge does not undermine the objectivity or veridicality of our knowledge; it merely entails that – like mathematics – history is inherently incomplete.

Doing history also forces the historian to make choices about the scale of the history with which he or she is concerned. Suppose we are interested in Asian history. Are we concerned with Asia as a continent, including China, India, Cambodia, and Japan, or the whole of China during the Ming Dynasty, or Hubei Province? Or if we define our interest in terms of a single important historical event like the Chinese Revolution, are we concerned with the whole of the Chinese Revolution, the base area of Yenan, or the specific experience of a handful of villages in Shandong during the 1940s? Given the fundamental heterogeneity of social life, the choice of scale makes an important difference to the findings.

Historians differ greatly around the decisions they make about scale. It is possible to treat any historical subject at the micro-scale. William Hinton provides what is almost a month-to-month description of the Chinese Revolution in Fanshen village—a collection of a few hundred families (Hinton 1966). Likewise, Emmanuel Le Roy Ladurie offers a deep treatment of the villagers of Montaillou; once again, a single village and a limited time (Le Roy Ladurie 1979). William Cronon provides a focused and detailed account of the development of Chicago as a metropolis for the middle of the United States (Cronon 1991). These histories are limited in time and space, and they can appropriately be called “micro-history.”

Macro-level history is possible as well. William McNeill provides a history of the world’s diseases (McNeill 1976); Massimo Livi-Bacci offers a history of the world’s population (Livi-Bacci 2007); and De Vries and Goudsblom provide an environmental history of the world (De Vries and Goudsblom 2002). In each of these cases, the historian has chosen a scale that encompasses virtually the whole of the globe, over millennia of time. These histories can certainly be called “macro-history.”

Both micro- and macro-histories have important shortcomings. Micro-history leaves us with the question, “how does this particular village shed light on anything larger?”. Macro-history leaves us with the question, “how do these large assertions about the nature of revolution or the importance of class conflict in mobilization apply in the context of Canada or Warsaw?”. The first threatens to be so particular as to lose all interest, whereas the second threatens to be so general as to lose all empirical relevance to real historical processes.

There is a third choice available to the historian that addresses both points. This is to choose a scale that encompasses enough time and space to be genuinely interesting and important, but not so much as to defy valid analysis. This level of scale might be regional—for example, G. William Skinner’s analysis of the macro-regions of China (Skinner 1977). It might be national—for example, a social and political history of Indonesia. And it might be supra-national—for example, an economic history of Western Europe or comparative treatment of Eurasian history. The key point is that historians in this middle range are free to choose the scale of analysis that seems to permit the best level of conceptualization of history, given the evidence that is available and the social processes that appear to be at work. And this mid-level scale permits the historian to make substantive judgments about the “reach” of social processes that are likely to play a causal role in the story that needs telling. This level of analysis can be referred to as “meso-history,” and it appears to offer an ideal mix of specificity and generality.

1.3 Memory, history, and narrative

What is the relation between history, memory, and narrative? We might put these concepts into a crude map by saying that "history" is an organized and evidence-based presentation of of the processes, actions, and events that have occurred for a people over an extended period of time; "memory" is the personal recollections and representations of individuals who lived through a series of events and processes; and "narratives" are the stories that ordinary people and historians weave together to make sense of the events and happenings through which a people and a person have lived. Collective memory, the idea that groups such as Welsh miners, Serbian villagers, or black Alabama farmers possess a collective representation of the past that binds them together, can be understood as a shared set of narratives and stories about the past events of the given group or community. We use narratives to make sense of things that have happened; to identify meanings and causes within this series of events; and to select the "important" events and processes out from the ordinary and inconsequential.

What is a narrative? Most generally, it is an account of how and why a situation or event came to be. A narrative is intended to provide an account of how a complex historical event unfolded and why. We want to understand the event in time. What were the contextual features that were relevant to the outcome—the conditions at one or more points in time that played a role? What were the actions and choices that agents performed, and why did they take these actions rather than other possible choices? What causal processes—either social or natural—may have played a role in influencing the outcome? So a narrative seeks to provide hermeneutic understanding of the outcome—why did actors behave as they did in bringing about the outcome?—and causal explanation—what social and natural processes were acting behind the backs of the actors in bringing about the outcome? And different narratives represent different mixes of hermeneutic and causal factors. A crucial and unavoidable feature of narrative history is the fact of selectivity. The narrative historian is forced to make choices and selections at every stage: between "significant" and "insignificant", between "sideshow" and "main event", and between levels of description.

It is evident that there are often multiple truthful, unbiased, and inconsistent narratives that can be told for a single complex event. Exactly because many things happened at once, actors’ motives were ambiguous, and the causal connections among events are debatable, it is possible to construct inconsistent narratives that are equally well supported by the evidence. Further, the intellectual interest that different historians bring to the happening can lead to differences in the narrative. One historian may be primarily interested in the role that different views of social justice played in the actions of the participants; another may be primarily interested in the role that social networks played; and a third may be especially interested in the role of charismatic personalities, with a consequent structuring to the narrative around the actions and speeches of the charismatic leader. Each of these may be truthful, objective, and unbiased—and inconsistent in important ways with the others. So narratives are underdetermined by the facts, and there is no such thing as an exhaustive and comprehensive telling of the story—only various tellings that emphasize one set of themes or another.

When we consider collective memory and social identity, we are also forced to recognize that powerful institutions attempt to shape the narrative of important events in ways that serve political interests. A group identity can be defined as a set of beliefs and stories about one’s home, one’s people, and one’s past. These ideas often involve answers to questions like these: Where did we come from? How did we get here? And perhaps, who are my enemies? So an identity involves a narrative, a creation story, or perhaps a remembrance of a long chain of disasters and crimes. Identity and collective memory are intertwined; monuments, songs, icons, and flags help to set the way points in the history of a people and the collective emotions that this group experiences. They have to do with the stories we tell each other about who we are; how our histories brought us to this place; and what large events shaped us as a "people". Governments, leaders, activists, and political parties all have an interest in shaping collective memory to their own ends. Collective memories and identities are interwoven with myths and folk histories. And, as Benedict Anderson (1983) demonstrated, these stories are more often than not fictions of various kinds, promulgated by individuals and groups who have an interest in shaping collective consciousness in one way or another.

The philosophy of history must pay attention to the nexus of experience, memory, and history. There is no single “Civil Rights era” experience or “Great Depression” experience; instead, historians must consider a wide range of sources and evidence, including oral histories, first-person accounts, photographs, and other traces of the human experience of the time to allow them to discern both variation and some degree of thematicization of memory and identity in the periods they study. Second, attention to history and memory highlights the amount of human and individual agency involved in memory. Memories must be created; agents must find frameworks within which to understand their moments of historical experience. Museums and monuments curate historical memories — often with biases of their own. A third and equally important point is the fact that memories become part of the political mobilization possibilities that exist for a group. Groups find their collective identities through shared understandings of the past; and these shared understandings provide a basis for future collective action. Paul Ricoeur’s Time and Narrative (1984-1988) sheds profound light on the profound relations that extend among memory, identity, narrative, and history.

2. Continental philosophy of history

The topic of history has been treated frequently in modern European philosophy. A long, largely German, tradition of thought looks at history as a total and comprehensible process of events, structures, and processes, for which the philosophy of history can serve as an interpretive tool. This approach, speculative and meta-historical, aims to discern large, embracing patterns and directions in the unfolding of human history, persistent notwithstanding the erratic back-and-forth of particular historical developments. Modern philosophers raising this set of questions about the large direction and meaning of history include Vico, Herder, and Hegel. A somewhat different line of thought in the continental tradition that has been very relevant to the philosophy of history is the hermeneutic tradition of the human sciences. Through their emphasis on the “hermeneutic circle” through which humans undertake to understand the meanings created by other humans—in texts, symbols, and actions—hermeneutic philosophers such as Schleiermacher (1838), Dilthey (1860–1903), and Ricoeur (1984-1988, 2000) offer philosophical arguments for emphasizing the importance of narrative interpretation within our understanding of history. Understanding history means providing a narrative that makes sense of it from beginning to end.

2.1 Universal or historical human nature?

Human beings make history; but what is the fundamental nature of the human being? Is there one fundamental “human nature,” or are the most basic features of humanity historically conditioned (Mandelbaum 1971)? Can the study of history shed light on this question? When we study different historical epochs, do we learn something about unchanging human beings—or do we learn about fundamental differences of motivation, reasoning, desire, and collectivity? Is humanity a historical product? Giambattista Vico’s New Science (1725) offered an interpretation of history that turned on the idea of a universal human nature and a universal history (see Berlin 2000 for commentary). Vico’s interpretation of the history of civilization offers the view that there is an underlying uniformity in human nature across historical settings that permits explanation of historical actions and processes. The common features of human nature give rise to a fixed series of stages of development of civil society, law, commerce, and government: universal human beings, faced with recurring civilizational challenges, produce the same set of responses over time. Two things are worth noting about this perspective on history: first, that it simplifies the task of interpreting and explaining history (because we can take it as given that we can understand the actors of the past based on our own experiences and nature); and second, it has an intellectual heir in twentieth-century social science theory in the form of rational choice theory as a basis for comprehensive social explanation.

Johann Gottfried Herder offers a strikingly different view about human nature and human ideas and motivations. Herder argues for the historical contextuality of human nature in his work, Ideas for the Philosophy of History of Humanity (1791). He offers a historicized understanding of human nature, advocating the idea that human nature is itself a historical product and that human beings act differently in different periods of historical development (1800–1877, 1791). Herder’s views set the stage for the historicist philosophy of human nature later found in such nineteenth-century figures as Hegel and Nietzsche. His perspective too prefigures an important current of thought about the social world in the late twentieth century, the idea of the “social construction” of human nature and social identities (Anderson 1983; Hacking 1999; Foucault 1971).

2.2 Does history possess directionality?

Philosophers have raised questions about the meaning and structure of the totality of human history. Some philosophers have sought to discover a large organizing theme, meaning, or direction in human history. This may take the form of an effort to demonstrate how history enacts a divine order, or reveals a large pattern (cyclical, teleological, progressive), or plays out an important theme (for example, Hegel’s conception of history as the unfolding of human freedom discussed below). The ambition in each case is to demonstrate that the apparent contingency and arbitrariness of historical events can be related to a more fundamental underlying purpose or order.

This approach to history may be described as hermeneutic; but it is focused on interpretation of large historical features rather than the interpretation of individual meanings and actions. In effect, it treats the sweep of history as a complicated, tangled text, in which the interpreter assigns meanings to some elements of the story in order to fit these elements into the larger themes and motifs of the story. (Ranke makes this point explicitly (1881).)

A recurring current in this approach to the philosophy of history falls in the area of theodicy or eschatology: religiously inspired attempts to find meaning and structure in history by relating the past and present to some specific, divinely ordained plan. Theologians and religious thinkers have attempted to find meaning in historical events as expressions of divine will. One reason for theological interest in this question is the problem of evil; thus Leibniz’s Theodicy attempts to provide a logical interpretation of history that makes the tragedies of history compatible with a benevolent God’s will (1709). In the twentieth century, theologians such as Maritain (1957), Rust (1947), and Dawson (1929) offered systematic efforts to provide Christian interpretations of history.

Enlightenment thinkers rejected the religious interpretation of history but brought in their own teleology, the idea of progress—the idea that humanity is moving in the direction of better and more perfect civilization, and that this progression can be witnessed through study of the history of civilization (Condorcet 1795; Montesquieu 1748). Vico’s philosophy of history seeks to identify a foundational series of stages of human civilization. Different civilizations go through the same stages, because human nature is constant across history (Pompa 1990). Rousseau (1762a; 1762b) and Kant (1784–5; 1784–6) brought some of these assumptions about rationality and progress into their political philosophies, and Adam Smith embodies some of this optimism about the progressive effects of rationality in his account of the unfolding of the modern European economic system (1776). This effort to derive a fixed series of stages as a tool of interpretation of the history of civilization is repeated throughout the eighteenth and nineteenth centuries; it finds expression in Hegel’s philosophy (discussed below), as well as Marx’s materialist theory of the development of economic modes of production (Marx and Engels 1845–49; Marx and Engels 1848).

The effort to find directionality or stages in history found a new expression in the early twentieth century, in the hands of several “meta-historians” who sought to provide a macro-interpretation that brought order to world history: Spengler (1934), Toynbee (1934), Wittfogel (1935), and Lattimore (1932). These authors offered a reading of world history in terms of the rise and fall of civilizations, races, or cultures. Their writings were not primarily inspired by philosophical or theological theories, but they were also not works of primary historical scholarship. Spengler and Toynbee portrayed human history as a coherent process in which civilizations pass through specific stages of youth, maturity, and senescence. Wittfogel and Lattimore interpreted Asian civilizations in terms of large determining factors. Wittfogel contrasts China’s history with that of Europe by characterizing China’s civilization as one of “hydraulic despotism”, with the attendant consequence that China’s history was cyclical rather than directional. Lattimore applies the key of geographic and ecological determinism to the development of Asian civilization (Rowe 2007).

A legitimate criticism of many efforts to offer an interpretation of the sweep of history is the view that it looks for meaning where none can exist. Interpretation of individual actions and life histories is intelligible, because we can ground our attributions of meaning in a theory of the individual person as possessing and creating meanings. But there is no super-agent lying behind historical events—for example, the French Revolution—and so it is a metaphysical mistake to attempt to find the meaning of the features of the event (e.g., the Terror). The theological approach purports to evade this criticism by attributing agency to God as the author of history, but the assumption that there is a divine author of history takes the making of history out of the hands of humanity.

Efforts to discern large stages in history such as those of Vico, Spengler, or Toynbee are vulnerable to a different criticism based on their mono-causal interpretations of the full complexity of human history. These authors single out one factor that is thought to drive history: a universal human nature (Vico), or a common set of civilizational challenges (Spengler, Toynbee). But their hypotheses need to be evaluated on the basis of concrete historical evidence. And the evidence concerning the large features of historical change over the past three millennia offers little support for the idea of one fixed process of civilizational development. Instead, human history, at virtually every scale, appears to embody a large degree of contingency and multiple pathways of development. This is not to say that there are no credible “large historical” interpretations available for human history and society. For example, Michael Mann’s sociology of early agrarian civilizations (1986), De Vries and Goudsblom’s efforts at global environmental history (2002), and Jared Diamond’s treatment of disease and warfare (1997) offer examples of scholars who attempt to explain some large features of human history on the basis of a few common human circumstances: the efforts of states to collect revenues, the need of human communities to exploit resources, or the global transmission of disease. The challenge for macro-history is to preserve the discipline of empirical evaluation for the large hypotheses that are put forward.

2.3 Hegel’s philosophy of history

Hegel’s philosophy of history is perhaps the most fully developed philosophical theory of history that attempts to discover meaning or direction in history (1824a, 1824b, 1857). Hegel regards history as an intelligible process moving towards a specific condition—the realization of human freedom. “The question at issue is therefore the ultimate end of mankind, the end which the spirit sets itself in the world” (1857: 63). Hegel incorporates a deeper historicism into his philosophical theories than his predecessors or successors. He regards the relationship between “objective” history and the subjective development of the individual consciousness (“spirit”) as an intimate one; this is a central thesis in his Phenomenology of Spirit (1807). And he views it to be a central task for philosophy to comprehend its place in the unfolding of history. “History is the process whereby the spirit discovers itself and its own concept” (1857: 62). Hegel constructs world history into a narrative of stages of human freedom, from the public freedom of the polis and the citizenship of the Roman Republic, to the individual freedom of the Protestant Reformation, to the civic freedom of the modern state. He attempts to incorporate the civilizations of India and China into his understanding of world history, though he regards those civilizations as static and therefore pre-historical (O’Brien 1975). He constructs specific moments as “world-historical” events that were in the process of bringing about the final, full stage of history and human freedom. For example, Napoleon’s conquest of much of Europe is portrayed as a world-historical event doing history’s work by establishing the terms of the rational bureaucratic state. Hegel finds reason in history; but it is a latent reason, and one that can only be comprehended when the fullness of history’s work is finished: “When philosophy paints its grey on grey, then has a shape of life grown old. … The owl of Minerva spreads its wings only with the falling of the dusk” ((Hegel 1821: 13). (See O’Brien (1975), Taylor (1975), and Kojève (1969) for treatments of Hegel’s philosophy of history.)

It is worth observing that Hegel’s philosophy of history is not the indefensible exercise of speculative philosophical reasoning that analytic philosophers sometimes paint it. His philosophical approach is not based solely on foundational apriori reasoning, and many of his interpretations of concrete historical developments are quite insightful. Instead he proposes an “immanent” encounter between philosophical reason and the historical given. Here is how W. H. Walsh (1960) describes Hegel’s intellectual project in his philosophy of history:

To accomplish this task the philosopher must take the results of empirical history as data, but it will not suffice for him merely to reproduce them. He must try to illuminate history by bringing his knowledge of the Idea, the formal articulation of reason, to bear upon it, striving, in a phrase Hegel uses elsewhere, to elevate empirical contents to the rank of necessary truth. (Walsh 1960: 143)

Hegel’s prescription is that the philosopher should seek to discover the rational within the real—not to impose the rational upon the real. “To comprehend what is, this is the task of philosophy, because what is, is reason” (1821: 11). His approach is neither purely philosophical nor purely empirical; instead, he undertakes to discover within the best historical knowledge of his time, an underlying rational principle that can be philosophically articulated (Avineri 1972).

2.4 Hermeneutic approaches to history

Another important strand of continental philosophy of history proposes to apply hermeneutics to problems of historical interpretation. This approach focuses on the meaning of the actions and intentions of historical individuals rather than historical wholes. This tradition derives from the tradition of scholarly Biblical interpretation. Hermeneutic scholars emphasized the linguistic and symbolic core of human interactions and maintained that the techniques that had been developed for the purpose of interpreting texts could also be employed to interpret symbolic human actions and products. Wilhelm Dilthey maintained that the human sciences were inherently distinct from the natural sciences in that the former depend on the understanding of meaningful human actions, while the latter depend on causal explanation of non-intensional events (1883, 1860-1903, 1910). Human life is structured and carried out through meaningful action and symbolic expressions. Dilthey maintains that the intellectual tools of hermeneutics—the interpretation of meaningful texts—are suited to the interpretation of human action and history. The method of verstehen (understanding) makes a methodology of this approach; it invites the thinker to engage in an active construction of the meanings and intentions of the actors from their point of view (Outhwaite 1975). This line of interpretation of human history found expression in the twentieth-century philosophical writings of Heidegger, Gadamer, Ricoeur, and Foucault. This tradition approaches the philosophy of history from the perspective of meaning and language. It argues that historical knowledge depends upon interpretation of meaningful human actions and practices. Historians should probe historical events and actions in order to discover the interconnections of meaning and symbolic interaction that human actions have created (Sherratt 2006).

The hermeneutic tradition took an important new turn in the mid-twentieth century, as philosophers attempted to make sense of modern historical developments including war, racism, and the Holocaust. Narratives of progress were no longer compelling, following the terrible events of the first half of the twentieth century. The focus of this approach might be labeled “history as remembrance.” Contributors to this strand of thought emerged from twentieth-century European philosophy, including existentialism and Marxism, and were influenced by the search for meaning in the Holocaust. Paul Ricoeur draws out the parallels between personal memory, cultural memory, and history (2000). Dominick LaCapra brings the tools of interpretation theory and critical theory to bear on his treatment of the representation of the trauma of the Holocaust (1994, 1998). Others emphasize the role that folk histories play in the construction and interpretation of “our” past. This is a theme that has been taken up by contemporary historians, for example, by Michael Kammen in his treatment of public remembrance of the American Civil War (1991). Memory and the representation of the past play a key role in the formation of racial and national identities; numerous twentieth-century philosophers have noted the degree of subjectivity and construction that are inherent in the national memories represented in a group’s telling of its history.

Although not himself falling within the continental lineage, R. G. Collingwood’s philosophy of history falls within the general framework of hermeneutic philosophy of history (1946). Collingwood focuses on the question of how to specify the content of history. He argues that history is constituted by human actions. Actions are the result of intentional deliberation and choice; so historians are able to explain historical processes “from within” as a reconstruction of the thought processes of the agents who bring them about. He presents the idea of re-enactment as a solution to the problem of knowledge of the past from the point of view of the present. The past is accessible to historians in the present, because it is open to them to re-enact important historical moments through imaginative reconstruction of the actors’ states of mind and intentions. He describes this activity of re-enactment in the context of the historical problem of understanding Plato’s meanings as a philosopher or Caesar’s intentions as a ruler:

This re-enactment is only accomplished, in the case of Plato and Caesar respectively, so far as the historian brings to bear on the problem all the powers of his own mind and all his knowledge of philosophy and politics. It is not a passive surrender to the spell of another’s mind; it is a labour of active and therefore critical thinking. (Collingwood 1946: 215)

2.5 Conceptual history

The post-war German historian Reinhart Koselleck made important contributions to the philosophy of history that are largely independent from the other sources of Continental philosophy of history mentioned here. (Koselleck’s contributions are ably discussed in Olsen 2012.) Koselleck contributed to a “conceptual and critical theory of history” (2002, 2004). His major compendium, with Brunner and Conze, of the history of concepts of history in the German-speaking world is one of the major expressions of this work (Brunner, Conze, and Koselleck 1972-97). Koselleck believes there are three key tasks for the metahistorian or philosopher: to identify the concepts that are either possible or necessary in characterizing history; to locate those concepts within the context of the social and political discourses and conflicts of the time period; and to critically evaluate various of these concepts for their usefulness in historical analysis.

Key examples that Koselleck develops include “space of experience” and “horizon of expectation”. Examples of metahistorical categories in Koselleck’s account include “capacity to die and capacity to kill,” “friend and foe,” “inside and outside,” and “master and servant”. Koselleck represents these conceptual oppositions as representing conditions of possibility of any representation of history (Bouton 2016: 178).

A large part of Koselleck’s work thus involves identifying and describing various kinds of historical concepts. In order to represent history it is necessary to make use of a vocabulary that distinguishes the things we need to talk about; and historical concepts permit these identifications. This in turn requires both conceptual and historical treatment: how the concepts are understood, and how they have changed over time. Christophe Bouton encapsulates Koselleck’s approach in these terms: “[It is an] inquiry into the historical categories that are used in, or presupposed by, the experience of history at its different levels, as events, traces, and narratives” (Bouton 2016: 164). Further, Bouton argues that Koselleck also brings a critical perspective to the concepts that he discusses: he asks the question of validity (Bouton 2016). To what extent do these particular concepts work well to characterize history?

What this amounts to is the idea that history is the result of conceptualization of the past on the part of the people who tell it—professional historians, politicians, partisans, and ordinary citizens. (It is interesting to note that Koselleck’s research in the final years of his career focused on the meaning of public monuments, especially war memorials.) It is therefore an important, even crucial, task to investigate the historical concepts that have been used to characterize the past. A key concept that was of interest to Koselleck was the idea of “modernity”. This approach might seem to fall within the larger field of intellectual history; but Koselleck and other exponents believe that the historical concepts in use actually play a role as well in the concrete historical developments that occur within a period.

It is worth noticing that history comes into Koselleck’s notion of Begriffsgeschichte in two ways. Koselleck is concerned to uncover the logic and semantics of the concepts that have been used to describe historical events and processes; and he is interested in the historical evolution of some of those concepts over time. (In this latter interest his definition of the question parallels that of the so-called Cambridge School of Quentin Skinner, John Dunn, and J. G. A. Pocock.) Numerous observers emphasize the importance of political conflict in Koselleck’s account of historical concepts: concepts are used by partisans to define the field of battle over values and loyalties (Pankakoski 2010). More generally, Koselleck’s aim is to excavate the layers of meaning that have been associated with key historical concepts in different historical periods. (Whatmore and Young 2015 provide extensive and useful accounts of each of the positions mentioned here.)

Conceptual history may appear to have a Kantian background—an exploration of the “categories” of thought on the basis of which alone history is intelligible. But this appears not to be Koselleck’s intention, and his approach is not apriori. Rather, he looks at historical concepts on a spectrum of abstraction, from relatively close to events (the French Revolution) to more abstract (revolutionary change). Moreover, he makes rigorous attempts to discover the meanings and uses of these concepts in their historical contexts.

Koselleck’s work defines a separate space within the field of the philosophy of history. It has to do with meanings in history, but it is neither teleological nor hermeneutic. It takes seriously the obligation of the historian excavate the historical facts with scrupulous rigor, but it is not empiricist or reductionist. It emphasizes the dependence of “history” on the conceptual resources of those who live history and those who tell history, but it is not post-modernist or relativist. Koselleck provides an innovative and constructive way of formulating the problem of historical knowledge.

3. Anglo-American philosophy of history

The traditions of empiricism and Anglo-American philosophy have also devoted occasional attention to history. Philosophers in this tradition have avoided the questions of speculative philosophy of history and have instead raised questions about the logic and epistemology of historical knowledge. Here the guiding question is, “What are the logical and epistemological characteristics of historical knowledge and historical explanation?”.

David Hume’s empiricism cast a dominant key for almost all subsequent Anglo-American philosophy, and this influence extends to the interpretation of human behavior and the human sciences. Hume wrote a widely read history of England (1754–1762). His interpretation of history was based on the assumption of ordinary actions, motives, and causes, with no sympathy for theological interpretations of the past. His philosophical view of history was premised on the idea that explanations of the past can be based on the assumption of a fixed human nature.

Anglo-American interest in the philosophy of history was renewed at mid-twentieth century with the emergence of “analytical philosophy of history.” Representative contributors include Dray (1957, 1964, 1966), Danto (1965), and Gardiner (1952, 1974). This approach involves the application of the methods and tools of analytic philosophy to the special problems that arise in the pursuit of historical explanations and historical knowledge (Gardiner 1952). Here the interest is in the characteristics of historical knowledge: how we know facts about the past, what constitutes a good historical explanation, whether explanations in history require general laws, and whether historical knowledge is underdetermined by available historical evidence. Analytic philosophers emphasized the empirical and scientific status of historical knowledge, and attempted to understand this claim along the lines of the scientific standing of the natural sciences (Nagel 1961).

Philosophers in the analytic tradition are deeply skeptical about the power of non-empirical reason to arrive at substantive conclusions about the structure of the world—including human history. Philosophical reasoning by itself cannot be a source of substantive knowledge about the natural world, or about the sequence of events, actions, states, classes, empires, plagues, and conquests that we call “history.” Rather, substantive knowledge about the world can only derive from empirical investigation and logical analysis of the consequences of these findings. So analytic philosophers of history have had little interest in the large questions about the meaning and structure of history considered above. The practitioners of speculative philosophy of history, on the other hand, are convinced of the power of philosophical thought to reason through to a foundational understanding of history, and would be impatient with a call for a purely empirical and conceptual approach to the subject.

W. H. Walsh’s Philosophy of History (Walsh 1960 [1951]), first published in 1951 and revised in 1960, is an open-minded and well-grounded effort to provide an in-depth presentation of the field that crosses the separation between continental and analytical philosophy. The book attempts to treat both major questions driving much of the philosophy of history: the nature of historical knowledge and the possibility of gaining “metaphysical” knowledge about history. An Oxford philosopher trained in modern philosophy, Walsh was strongly influenced by Collingwood and was well aware of the European idealist tradition of philosophical thinking about history, including Rickert, Dilthey, and Croce, and he treats this tradition in a serious way. He draws the distinction between these traditions along the lines of “critical” and “speculative” philosophy of history. Walsh’s goal for the book is ambitious; he hopes to propose a framework within which the main questions about history can be addressed, including both major traditions. He advances the view that the historian is presented with a number of events, actions, and developments during a period. How do they hang together? The process of cognition through which the historian makes sense of a set of separate historical events Walsh refers to as “colligation” — “to locate a historical event in a larger historical process in terms of which it makes sense” (23).

Walsh fundamentally accepts Collingwood’s most basic premise: that history concerns conscious human action. Collingwood’s slogan was that “history is the science of the mind,” and Walsh appears to accept much of this perspective. So the key intellectual task for the historian, on this approach, is to reconstruct the reasons or motives that actors had at various points in history (and perhaps the conditions that led them to have these reasons and motives). This means that the tools of interpretation of meanings and reasons are crucial for the historian—much as the hermeneutic philosophers in the German tradition had argued.

Walsh suggests that the philosophical content of the philosophy of history falls naturally into two different sorts of inquiry, parallel to the distinction between philosophy of nature and philosophy of science. The first has to do with metaphysical questions about the reality of history as a whole; the latter has to do with the epistemic issues that arise in the pursuit and formulation of knowledge of history. He refers to these approaches as “speculative” and “critical” aspects of the philosophy of history. And he attempts to formulate a view of what the key questions are for each approach. Speculative philosophy of history asks about the meaning and purpose of the historical process. Critical philosophy of history is what we now refer to as “analytic” philosophy; it is the equivalent for history of what the philosophy of science is for nature.

3.1 General laws in history?

The philosopher of science Carl Hempel stimulated analytic philosophers’ interest in historical knowledge in his essay, “The Function of General Laws in History” (1942). Hempel’s general theory of scientific explanation held that all scientific explanations require subsumption under general laws. Hempel considered historical explanation as an apparent exception to the covering-law model and attempted to show the suitability of the covering-law model even to this special case. He argued that valid historical explanations too must invoke general laws. The covering-law approach to historical explanation was supported by other analytical philosophers of science, including Ernest Nagel (1961). Hempel’s essay provoked a prolonged controversy between supporters who cited generalizations about human behavior as the relevant general laws, and critics who argued that historical explanations are more akin to explanations of individual behavior, based on interpretation that makes the outcome comprehensible. Especially important discussions were offered by William Dray (1957), Michael Scriven (1962), and Alan Donagan (1966). Donagan and others pointed out the difficulty that many social explanations depend on probabilistic regularities rather than universal laws. Others, including Scriven, pointed out the pragmatic features of explanation, suggesting that arguments that fall far short of deductive validity are nonetheless sufficient to “explain” a given historical event in a given context of belief. The most fundamental objections, however, are these: first, that there are virtually no good examples of universal laws in history, whether of human behavior or of historical event succession (Donagan 1966: 143–45); and second, that there are other compelling schemata through which we can understand historical actions and outcomes that do not involve subsumption under general laws (Elster 1989). These include the processes of reasoning through which we understand individual actions—analogous to the methods of verstehen and the interpretation of rational behavior mentioned above (Dray 1966: 131–37); and the processes through which we can trace out chains of causation and specific causal mechanisms without invoking universal laws.

A careful re-reading of these debates over the covering-law model in history suggests that the debate took place largely because of the erroneous assumption of the unity of science and the postulation of the regulative logical similarity of all areas of scientific reasoning to a few clear examples of explanation in a few natural sciences. This approach was a deeply impoverished one, and handicapped from the start in its ability to pose genuinely important questions about the nature of history and historical knowledge. Explanation of human actions and outcomes should not be understood along the lines of an explanation of why radiators burst when the temperature falls below zero degrees centigrade. As Donagan concludes, “It is harmful to overlook the fundamental identity of the social sciences with history, and to mutilate research into human affairs by remodeling the social sciences into deformed likenesses of physics” (1966: 157). The insistence on naturalistic models for social and historical research leads easily to a presumption in favor of the covering-law model of explanation, but this presumption is misleading.

3.2 Historical objectivity

Another issue that provoked significant attention among analytic philosophers of history is the issue of “objectivity.” Is it possible for historical knowledge to objectively represent the past? Or are forms of bias, omission, selection, and interpretation such as to make all historical representations dependent on the perspective of the individual historian? Does the fact that human actions are value-laden make it impossible for the historian to provide a non-value-laden account of those actions?

This topic divides into several different problems, as noted by John Passmore (1966: 76). The most studied of these within the analytic tradition is that of the value-ladenness of social action. Second is the possibility that the historian’s interpretations are themselves value-laden—raising the question of the capacity for objectivity or neutrality of the historian herself. Does the intellectual have the ability to investigate the world without regard to the biases that are built into her political or ethical beliefs, her ideology, or her commitments to a class or a social group? And third is the question of the objectivity of the historical circumstances themselves. Is there a fixed historical reality, independent from later representations of the facts? Or is history intrinsically “constructed,” with no objective reality independent from the ways in which it is constructed? Is there a reality corresponding to the phrase, “the French Revolution,” or is there simply an accumulation of written versions of the French Revolution?

There are solutions to each of these problems that are highly consonant with the philosophical assumptions of the analytic tradition. First, concerning values: There is no fundamental difficulty in reconciling the idea of a researcher with one set of religious values, who nonetheless carefully traces out the religious values of a historical actor possessing radically different values. This research can be done badly, of course; but there is no inherent epistemic barrier that makes it impossible for the researcher to examine the body of statements, behaviors, and contemporary cultural institutions corresponding to the other, and to come to a justified representation of the other. One need not share the values or worldview of a sans-culotte, in order to arrive at a justified appraisal of those values and worldview. This leads us to a resolution of the second issue as well—the possibility of neutrality on the part of the researcher. The set of epistemic values that we impart to scientists and historians include the value of intellectual discipline and a willingness to subject their hypotheses to the test of uncomfortable facts. Once again, review of the history of science and historical writing makes it apparent that this intellectual value has effect. There are plentiful examples of scientists and historians whose conclusions are guided by their interrogation of the evidence rather than their ideological presuppositions. Objectivity in pursuit of truth is itself a value, and one that can be followed.

Finally, on the question of the objectivity of the past: Is there a basis for saying that events or circumstances in the past have objective, fixed characteristics that are independent from our representation of those events? Is there a representation-independent reality underlying the large historical structures to which historians commonly refer (the Roman Empire, the Great Wall of China, the imperial administration of the Qianlong Emperor)? We can work our way carefully through this issue, by recognizing a distinction between the objectivity of past events, actions and circumstances, the objectivity of the contemporary facts that resulted from these past events, and the objectivity and fixity of large historical entities. The past occurred in precisely the way that it did—agents acted, droughts occurred, armies were defeated, new technologies were invented. These occurrences left traces of varying degrees of information richness; and these traces give us a rational basis for arriving at beliefs about the occurrences of the past. So we can offer a non-controversial interpretation of the “objectivity of the past.” However, this objectivity of events and occurrences does not extend very far upward as we consider more abstract historical events: the creation of the Greek city-state, the invention of Enlightenment rationality, the Taiping Rebellion. In each of these instances the noun’s referent is an interpretive construction by historical actors and historians, and one that may be undone by future historians. To refer to the “Taiping Rebellion” requires an act of synthesis of a large number of historical facts, along with an interpretive story that draws these facts together in this way rather than that way. The underlying facts of behavior, and their historical traces, remain; but the knitting-together of these facts into a large historical event does not constitute an objective historical entity. Consider research in the past twenty years that questions the existence of the “Industrial Revolution.” In this debate, the same set of historical facts were first constructed into an abrupt episode of qualitative change in technology and output in Western Europe; under the more recent interpretation, these changes were more gradual and less correctly characterized as a “revolution” (O’Brien and Keyder 1978). Or consider Arthur Waldron’s sustained and detailed argument to the effect that there was no “Great Wall of China,” as that structure is usually conceptualized (1990).

3.3 Causation in history

A third important set of issues that received attention from analytic philosophers concerned the role of causal ascriptions in historical explanations. What is involved in saying that “The American Civil War was caused by economic conflict between the North and the South”? Does causal ascription require identifying an underlying causal regularity—for example, “periods of rapid inflation cause political instability”? Is causation established by discovering a set of necessary and sufficient conditions? Can we identify causal connections among historical events by tracing a series of causal mechanisms linking one to the next? This topic raises the related problem of determinism in history: are certain events inevitable in the circumstances? Was the fall of the Roman Empire inevitable, given the configuration of military and material circumstances prior to the crucial events?

Analytic philosophers of history most commonly approached these issues on the basis of a theory of causation drawn from positivist philosophy of science. This theory is ultimately grounded in Humean assumptions about causation: that causation is nothing but constant conjunction. So analytic philosophers were drawn to the covering-law model of explanation, because it appeared to provide a basis for asserting historical causation. As noted above, this approach to causal explanation is fatally flawed in the social sciences, because universal causal regularities among social phenomena are unavailable. So it is necessary either to arrive at other interpretations of causality or to abandon the language of causality. A second approach was to define causes in terms of a set of causally relevant conditions for the occurrence of the event—for example, necessary and/or sufficient conditions, or a set of conditions that enhance or reduce the likelihood of the event. This approach found support in “ordinary language” philosophy and in analysis of the use of causal language in such contexts as the courtroom (Hart and Honoré 1959). Counterfactual reasoning is an important element of discovery of a set of necessary and/or sufficient conditions; to say that \(C\) was necessary for the occurrence of \(E\) requires that we provide evidence that \(E\) would not have occurred if \(C\) were not present (Mackie 1965, 1974). And it is evident that there are causal circumstances in which no single factor is necessary for the occurrence of the effect; the outcome may be overdetermined by multiple independent factors.

The convergence of reasons and causes in historical processes is helpful in this context, because historical causes are frequently the effect of deliberate human action (Davidson 1963). So specifying the reason for the action is simultaneously identifying a part of the cause of the consequences of the action. It is often justifiable to identify a concrete action as the cause of a particular event (a circumstance that was sufficient in the existing circumstances to bring about the outcome), and it is feasible to provide a convincing interpretation of the reasons that led the actor to carry out the action.

What analytic philosophers of the 1960s did not come to, but what is crucial for current understanding of historical causality, is the feasibility of tracing causal mechanisms through a complex series of events (causal realism). Historical narratives often take the form of an account of a series of events, each of which was a causal condition or trigger for later events. Subsequent research in the philosophy of the social sciences has provided substantial support for historical explanations that depend on tracing a series of causal mechanisms (Little 2018; Hedström and Swedberg 1998).

3.4 Recent topics in the philosophy of history

English-speaking philosophy of history shifted significantly in the 1970s, beginning with the publication of Hayden White’s Metahistory (1973) and Louis Mink’s writings of the same period (1966; Mink et al. 1987). The so-called “linguistic turn” that marked many areas of philosophy and literature also influenced the philosophy of history. Whereas analytic philosophy of history had emphasized scientific analogies for historical knowledge and advanced the goals of verifiability and generalizability in historical knowledge, English-speaking philosophers in the 1970s and 1980s were increasingly influenced by hermeneutic philosophy, post-modernism, and French literary theory (Rorty 1979). These philosophers emphasized the rhetoric of historical writing, the non-reducibility of historical narrative to a sequence of “facts”, and the degree of construction that is involved in historical representation. Affinities with literature and anthropology came to eclipse examples from the natural sciences as guides for representing historical knowledge and historical understanding. The richness and texture of the historical narrative came in for greater attention than the attempt to provide causal explanations of historical outcomes. Frank Ankersmit captured many of these themes in his treatment of historical narrative (1995; Ankersmit and Kellner 1995); see also Berkhofer (1995).

This “new” philosophy of history is distinguished from analytic philosophy of history in several important respects. It emphasizes historical narrative rather than historical causation. It is intellectually closer to the hermeneutic tradition than to the positivism that underlay the analytic philosophy of history of the 1960s. It highlights features of subjectivity and multiple interpretation over those of objectivity, truth, and correspondence to the facts. Another important strand in this approach to the philosophy of history is a clear theoretical preference for the historicist rather than the universalist position on the status of human nature—Herder rather than Vico. The prevalent perspective holds that human consciousness is itself a historical product, and that it is an important part of the historian’s work to piece together the mentality and assumptions of actors in the past (Pompa 1990). Significantly, contemporary historians such as Robert Darnton have turned to the tools of ethnography to permit this sort of discovery (1984).

Another important strand of thinking within analytic philosophy has focused attention on historical ontology (Hacking 2002, Little 2010). The topic of historical ontology is important, both for philosophers and for practicing historians. Ontology has to do with the question, what kinds of things do we need to postulate in a given realm? Historical ontology poses this question with regard to the realities of the past. Should large constructs like ‘revolution’, ‘market society’, ‘fascism’, or ‘Protestant religious identity’ be included in our ontology as real things? Or should we treat these ideas in a purely nominalistic way, treating them as convenient ways of aggregating complex patterns of social action and knowledge by large numbers of social actors in a time and place? Further, how should we think about the relationship between instances and categories in the realm of history, for example, the relation between the French, Chinese, or Russian Revolutions and the general category of ‘revolution’? Are there social kinds that recur in history, or is each historical formation unique in important ways? These are all questions of ontology, and the answers we give to them will have important consequences for how we conceptualize and explain the past.

4. Historiography and the philosophy of history

When historians discuss methodological issues in their research they more commonly refer to “historiography” than to “philosophy of history.” What is the relation between these bodies of thought about the writing of history? We should begin by asking the basic question: what is historiography? In its most general sense, the term refers to the study of historians’ methods and practices. Any intellectual or creative practice is guided by a set of standards and heuristics about how to proceed, and “experts” evaluate the performances of practitioners based on their judgments of how well the practitioner meets the standards. So one task we always have in considering an expert activity is to attempt to identify these standards and criteria of good performance. This is true for theatre and literature, and it is true for writing history. Historiography is at least in part the effort to do this work for a particular body of historical writing. (Several handbooks contain a wealth of recent writings on various aspects of historiography; Tucker 2009, Bentley 1997, Breisach 2007. Important and innovative contributions to understanding the intellectual tasks of the historian include Bloch 1953 and Paul 2015.)

Historians normally make truth claims, and they ask us to accept those claims based on the reasoning they present. So a major aspect of the study of historiography has to do with defining the ideas of evidence, rigor, and standards of reasoning for historical inquiry. We presume that historians want to discover empirically supported truths about the past, and we presume that they want to offer inferences and interpretations that are somehow regulated by standards of scientific rationality. (Simon Schama challenges some of these ideas in Dead Certainties (Schama 1991).) So the apprentice practitioner seeks to gain knowledge of the practices of his/her elders in the profession: what counts as a compelling argument, how to assess a body of archival evidence, how to offer or criticize an interpretation of complex events that necessarily exceeds the available evidence. The historiographer has a related task: he/she would like to be able to codify the main methods and standards of one historical school or another.

There are other desiderata governing a good historical work, and these criteria may change from culture to culture and epoch to epoch. Discerning the historian’s goals is crucial to deciding how well he or she succeeds. So discovering these stylistic and aesthetic standards that guide the historian’s work is itself an important task for historiography. This means that the student of historiography will naturally be interested in the conventions of historical writing and rhetoric that are characteristic of a given period or school.

A full historiographic assessment of a given historian might include questions like these: What methods of discovery does he/she use? What rhetorical and persuasive goals does he/she pursue? What models of explanation? What paradigm of presentation? What standards of style and rhetoric? What interpretive assumptions?

A historical school might be defined as a group of interrelated historians who share a significant number of specific assumptions about evidence, explanation, and narrative. The Annales school, established by Marc Bloch and Lucien Febvre in the 1920s, represented a distinctive and fertile approach to social history (Burguière 2009), united by shared assumptions about both topics and intellectual approaches to the past. Historiography becomes itself historical when we recognize that frameworks of assumptions about historical knowledge and reasoning change over time. On this assumption, the history of historical thinking and writing is itself an important subject. How did historians of various periods in human history conduct their study and presentation of history? Under this rubric we find books on the historiography of the ancient Greeks; Renaissance historiography; or the historiography of German romanticism. Arnaldo Momigliano’s writings on the ancient historians fall in this category (Momigliano 1990). In a nutshell, Momigliano is looking at the several traditions of ancient history-writing as a set of normative practices that can be dissected and understood in their specificity and their cultural contexts.

A second primary use of the concept of historiography is more present-oriented and methodological. It involves the study and analysis of historical methods of research, inquiry, inference, and presentation used by more-or-less contemporary historians. How do contemporary historians go about their tasks of understanding the past? Here we can reflect upon the historiographical challenges that confronted Philip Huang as he investigated the Chinese peasant economy in the 1920s and 1930s (Huang 1990), or the historiographical issues raised in Robert Darnton’s telling of a peculiar and trivial event, the Great Cat Massacre by printers’ apprentices in Paris in the 1730s (Darnton 1984). Sometimes these issues have to do with the scarcity or bias in the available bodies of historical records (for example, the fact that much of what Huang refers to about the village economy of North China was gathered by the research teams of the occupying Japanese army). Sometimes they have to do with the difficulty of interpreting historical sources (for example, the unavoidable necessity Darnton faced of providing meaningful interpretation of a range of documented actions that appear fundamentally irrational).

An important question that arises in recent historiography is that of the status of the notion of “global history.” One important reason for thinking globally as an historian is the fact that the history discipline—since the Greeks—has tended to be Eurocentric in its choice of topics, framing assumptions, and methods. Economic and political history, for example, often privileges the industrial revolution in England and the creation of the modern bureaucratic state in France, Britain, and Germany, as being exemplars of “modern” development in economics and politics. This has led to a tendency to look at other countries’ development as non-standard or stunted. So global history is, in part, a framework within which the historian avoids privileging one regional center as primary and others as secondary or peripheral. Bin Wong makes this point in China Transformed (Wong 1997).

Second is the related fact that when Western historical thinkers—for example, Hegel, Malthus, Montesquieu—have turned their attention to Asia, they have often engaged in a high degree of stereotyping without much factual historical knowledge. The ideas of Oriental despotism, Asian overpopulation, and Chinese stagnation have encouraged a cartoonish replacement of the intricate and diverse processes of development of different parts of Asia by a single-dimensional and reductive set of simplifying frameworks of thought. This is one of the points of Edward Said’s critique of orientalism (Said 1978). So doing “global” history means paying rigorous attention to the specificities of social, political, and cultural arrangements in other parts of the world besides Europe.

So a historiography that takes global diversity seriously should be expected to be more agnostic about patterns of development, and more open to discovery of surprising patterns, twists, and variations in the experiences of India, China, Indochina, the Arab world, the Ottoman Empire, and Sub-Saharan Africa. Variation and complexity are what we should expect, not stereotyped simplicity. Clifford Geertz’s historical reconstruction of the “theatre state” of Bali is a case in point—he uncovers a complex system of governance, symbol, value, and hierarchy that represents a substantially different structure of politics than the models derived from the emergence of bureaucratic states in early modern Europe (Geertz 1980). A global history needs to free itself from Eurocentrism.

This step away from Eurocentrism in outlook should also be accompanied by a broadening of the geographical range of what is historically interesting. So a global history ought to be global and trans-national in its selection of topics—even while recognizing the fact that all historical research is selective. A globally oriented historian will recognize that the political systems of classical India are as interesting and complex as the organization of the Roman Republic.

An important current underlying much work in global history is the reality of colonialism through the nineteenth and twentieth centuries, and the equally important reality of anti-colonial struggles and nation building in the 1960s and 1970s. “The world” was important in the early-modern capitals of Great Britain, France, Germany, and Belgium because those nations exerted colonial rule in various parts of Africa, Asia, and South America. So there was a specific interest in gaining certain kinds of knowledge about those societies—in order to better govern them and exploit them. And post-colonial states had a symmetrical interest in supporting global historiography in their own universities and knowledge systems, in order to better understand and better critique the forming relations of the past.

A final way in which history needs to become global is to incorporate the perspectives and historical traditions of historians in non-western countries into the mainstream of discussion of major world developments. Indian and Chinese historians have their own intellectual traditions in conducting historical research and explanation; a global history is one that pays attention to the insights and arguments of these traditions. So global historiography has to do with a broadened definition of the arena of historical change to include Europe, Asia, Africa, the Middle East, and the Americas; a recognition of the complexity and sophistication of institutions and systems in many parts of the world; a recognition of the trans-national interrelatedness that has existed among continents for at least four centuries; and a recognition of the complexity and distinctiveness of different national traditions of historiography

Dominic Sachsenmaier provides a significant recent discussion of some of these issues (Sachsenmaier 2011). Sachsenmaier devotes much of his attention to the last point mentioned here, the “multiple global perspectives” point. He wants to take this idea seriously and try to discover some of the implications of different national traditions of academic historiography. He writes, “It will become quite clear that in European societies the question of historiographical traditions tended to be answered in ways that were profoundly different from most academic communities in other parts of the world” (17).

As should be clear from these remarks, there is a degree of overlap between historiography and the philosophy of history in the fact that both are concerned with identifying and evaluating the standards of reasoning that are used in various historical traditions. That said, historiography is generally more descriptive and less evaluative than the philosophy of history. And it is more concerned with the specifics of research and writing than is the philosophy of history.

5. Historical understanding and the twentieth century

Every period presents challenges for the historian, and every period raises problems for historiography and the philosophy of history. The twentieth century is exceptional, however, even by this standard. Events of truly global significance occurred from beginning to end. War, totalitarianism, genocide, mass starvation, ideologies of murder and extermination, and states that dominated their populations with unprecedented violence all transpired during the century. The Holocaust (Snyder 2010, 2015), the Holodomor (Applebaum 2017), the Gulag (Applebaum 2003), and the cultural and ideological premises of the Nazi regime (Rabinbach et al 2020) have all presented historians with major new challenges of research, framing, and understanding. How should historians seek to come to grips with these complex and horrifying circumstances? These occurrences were highly complex and extended and often hidden: many thousands of active participants, many groups and populations, millions of victims, conflicting purposes and goals, new organizations and institutions, numerous ideologies. Moreover, through too many of these novelties is woven the theme of evil – deliberate destruction, degradation, and murder of masses of innocent human beings. The historian of virtually any aspect of the twentieth century is confronted with great problems of frame-setting, explanatory purpose, and moral reflection.

These facts about the twentieth century raise problems for the philosophy of history for several reasons. They challenge historians to consider the depth, detail, and human experience that the historian must convey of the events and experiences that war, genocide, and totalitarianism imposed on millions of people. The discovery and truthful documentation of the extent and lived experience of these crimes is a painful but crucial necessity. Second, historians are forced to reflect on the assumptions they bring to their research and interpretations – assumptions about geography, political causation, individual motivation, and behavior resulting in these crimes. Third, historians must reconsider and sharpen their hypotheses about causation of these vast and extended crimes against humanity. Fourth, it appears inescapable that historians have a human responsibility to contribute to worldwide changes in culture, memory, and politics in ways that make genocide and totalitarian oppression less likely in the future.

The ways in which historians have sought to understand the Holocaust have undergone important historical realignment in the past twenty years. Raul Hilberg (1961) and Lucy Dawidowicz (1975) captured much of the postwar historical consensus about the Holocaust. However, recent historians have offered new ways of thinking about the Nazi plan of extermination. Timothy Snyder (2010, 2015) argues that the Nazi war of extermination against the Jews has been importantly misunderstood—too centered on Germany, when the majority of genocide and murder occurred further east, in the lands that he calls the “bloodlands” of central Europe (Poland, Latvia, Lithuania, Ukraine, the Soviet Union); largely focused on extermination camps, whereas most killing of Jews occurred near the cities and villages where they lived, and most commonly by gunfire; insufficiently attentive to the relationship between extermination of people and destruction of the institutions of state in subject countries; and without sufficient attention to Hitler’s own worldview, within which the Nazi war of extermination against Europe’s Jews was framed. Alexander Prusin (2010) conceptualizes the topic of mass murder in the period 1933–1945 in much the same geographical terms. Like Snyder, Prusin defines his subject matter as a region rather than a nation or collection of nations. The national borders that exist within the region are of less importance in his account than the facts of ethnic, religious, and community disparities that are evident across the region. Thus both historians argue that we need to understand the geography of the Holocaust differently. Snyder believes that these attempts at refocusing the way we understand the Holocaust lead to a new assessment: bad as we thought the Holocaust was, it was much, much worse.

Another strand of re-thinking that has occurred in the study of the Holocaust concerns a renewed focus on the motivations of the ordinary people who participated in the machinery of mass murder. A major field of research into ordinary behavior during the Holocaust was made possible by the availability of investigative files concerning the actions of a Hamburg police unit that was assigned special duties as “Order Police” in Poland in 1940. These duties amounted to collecting and massacring large numbers of Jewish men, women, and children. Thomas Browning (1992) and Daniel Goldhagen (1996) made extensive use of investigatory files and testimonies of the men of Reserve Police Battalion 101. Both books came to shocking conclusions: very ordinary, middle-aged, apolitical men of the police unit picked up the work of murder and extermination with zeal and efficiency. They were not coerced, they were not indoctrinated, and they were not deranged; and yet they turned to the work of mass murder with enthusiasm. A small percentage of the men of the unit declined the shooting assignments, but the great majority did not. Another important example of research on ordinary people committing mass murder is Jan Gross’s (2001) case study of a single massacre of Jews in Jedwabne, a small Polish town during the Nazi occupation, but not ordered or directed by the German occupation. Instead, this was a local, indigenous action by non-Jewish residents in the town who gathered up their Jewish neighbors and then murdered large numbers of them. Gross’s account has stimulated much debate, but Anna Bikont (2015) validates almost every detail of Gross’s original narrative.

As a different example, consider now the history of the Gulag in the Soviet Union. Anne Applebaum (2003) provides a detailed and honest history of the Gulag and its role in maintaining Soviet dictatorship. Stalin’s dictatorship depended on a leader, a party, and a set of institutions that worked to terrorize and repress the population of the USSR. The NKVD (the system of internal security police that enforced Stalin’s repression), a justice system that was embodied in the Moscow Show Trials of 1936–38, and especially the system of forced labor and prison camps that came to be known as the Gulag constituted the machinery of repression through which a population of several hundred million people were controlled, imprisoned, and repressed. Further, like the Nazi regime, Stalin used the slave labor of the camps to contribute to the economic output of the Soviet economy. Applebaum estimates that roughly two million prisoners inhabited several thousand camps of the Gulag at a time in the 1940s, and that as many as 18 million people had passed through the camps by 1953 (Applebaum 2003: 13). The economic role of the Gulag was considerable; significant portions of Soviet-era mining, logging, and manufacturing took place within the forced labor camps of the Gulag (13). Applebaum makes a crucial and important point about historical knowledge in her history of the Gulag: the inherent incompleteness of historical understanding and the mechanisms of overlooking and forgetting that get in the way of historical honesty. The public outside the USSR did not want to know about these realities. Applebaum notes that public knowledge of the camps in the West was available, but was de-dramatized and treated as a fairly minor part of the reality of the USSR. The reality—that the USSR embodied and depended upon a massive set of concentrations camps where millions of people were enslaved and sometimes killed—was never a major part of the Western conception of the USSR. She comments, "far more common, however, is a reaction of boredom or indifference to Stalinist terror" (18). Wide knowledge in the West of the scope and specific human catastrophe of the Gulag was first made available by Aleksandr Isayevich Solzhenitsyn (1974).

Similar references could be offered concerning Stalin’s war on the kulaks in the Ukraine (1930s), mass starvation in China (1958–61), the widespread violence of the Cultural Revolution in China (1966–1976), and the use of violence in the American South to enforce Jim Crow-era race relations (1930s–1960s). In each case terrible things took place on a wide scale, and barriers exist that make it difficult for historians and the public to come to know the details of these periods.

The twentieth century poses one additional challenge for the historian because it falls within the human memories of the living generation of historians grappling with its intricacies. When Tony Judt writes (2006) about the fall of Ceaușescu in Romania in 1989, or Timothy Snyder (2010) writes about the murderous actions of German order police in Ukraine in 1940, or Marc Bloch (1949) writes about the “strange defeat” of France in 1940, they are writing about events for which they themselves, or their parents, or Poles and Ukrainian Jews with whom they can interact, have direct lived experiences and memories. Timothy Snyder’s style of historical writing suggests that the nearness in time of the killings in the bloodlands both supports and warrants an especially personal and individual approach; thus Snyder’s use of many individual stories of victims of the killings of peasants, Jews, and other human victims of the killing machines of Hitler and Stalin suggests that he believes it is important for the historian to make an effort to convey the individual meanings of these events affecting millions of people. How does this accessibility of the recent past affect the problems facing the historian? Does it influence the ways in which historians select events, causes, and actions as “crucial”? Does this experiential access through living memory provide a more secure form of historical evidence than other sources available to the historian? Does it give rise to an experiential content and detail to historical writing that solve an interpretive problem for the reader – for example, how to put oneself in the position of a Ukrainian peasant slowly starving to death? Did the stories told in the Judt household in London in 1942 about beloved cousins then facing deadly threats in Brussels shape the historical consciousness of the adult historian (Judt and Snyder 2012)? Did Marc Bloch’s own experience as a French army officer in defeat at Dunkirk influence the way that he understood war and violence? Access to individuals who lived through the Holodomor or the Spanish Civil War is of course valuable historical evidence. Here too, however, Marc Bloch has important insights, for Bloch specifically challenges the idea that participants have an inherently more reliable or complete form of knowledge than more temporally distant historians (1953: chapter II). Memories and personal accounts are valuable for the historian, but equally, historians have access to other forms of historical evidence (archaeological, archival, government records, …) which may be comparably important and epistemically secure in attempting to piece together the complex history of Stalin’s war on the Ukrainian peasantry.

These topics in twentieth-century history create an important reminder for historians and for philosophers: a truthful understanding of inhuman atrocity is deeply important for humanity, and it is difficult to attain. We learn from Judt, Snyder, and Applebaum that there are powerful mechanisms of deception and forgetting that stand in the way of an honest accounting of these periods of the recent human past. Discovering and telling the truth about our past is the highest and most important moral imperative that history conveys.

6. Ethics, history, and memory

As the previous section suggests, there is an ethical dimension involved in the quest for historical knowledge. Historians have obligations of truthfulness and objectivity; peoples have obligations of honest recognition; and nations have obligations of memory and reconciliation.

Historians themselves have obligations of truthfulness and objectivity in the accounts they provide of the past. This topic has occupied much of the discussion of history and ethics in the past few years (Fay 2004). Much of this discussion has centered on the intellectual virtues to which historians need to aspire, such as truthfulness, objectivity, and persistence (Creyghton et al 2016, Paul 2015). Perhaps more generally, we might argue that historians have an obligation to deliberately and actively include those aspects of the past for further research that are the most morally troublesome—for example, the origins and experience of slavery during the eighteenth century in the American South, or the role of the Gulag in the Soviet Union in the twentieth century. We may reasonably fault the historian of the American South in the nineteenth century who confines her investigation to the economics of the cotton industry without examining the role of slavery in that industry, or the historian of the USSR who studies the institutions of engineering research in the 1950s while ignoring the fact of forced labor camps. Historians have an obligation to squarely confront the hard truths of their subject matter.

There is a broader ethical question to ask about history that goes beyond the professional ethics of the historian to the responsibilities of the public in relation to its own history. The facts of genocide and other crimes against humanity make it clear that there are moral reasons for believing that all of humanity has a moral responsibility to attempt to discover our past with honesty and exactness. In particular, the facts of past horrific actions (genocide, mass repression, slavery, suppression of ethnic minorities, dictatorship) create a moral responsibility for historians and the public alike to uncover the details, causes, and consequences of those actions.

The thread of honesty and truthfulness runs through all of these ethical issues. Tony Judt (1992) argues that a people or nation at a point in time have a collective responsibility to face the facts of its own history honestly and without mythology. Judt’s points can be distilled into a few key ideas. Knowledge of the past matters in the present; being truthful about the past is a key responsibility for all of us. Standing in the way of honest recognition is the fact that oppressors and tyrants are invariably interested in concealing their culpability, while “innocent citizens” are likewise inclined to minimize their own involvement in the crimes of their governments. The result is "myth-making", according to Judt. Anna Wylegala (2017) illustrates the moral importance and complexity of this kind of investigation with regard to collective memory in post-1991 Ukraine. The history of the twentieth century has shown itself to be especially prone to myth-making, whether about resistance to Nazi occupation or refusal to collaborate with Soviet-installed regimes in Poland or Czechoslovakia. Judt (1992) argues that a very pervasive process of myth-making and forgetting has been a deep part of the narrative-making in post-war Europe. But, Judt argues, bad myths give rise eventually to bad collective behavior—more conflict, more tyranny, more violence. So the work of honest history is crucial to humanity’s ability to achieve a better future. Judt expresses throughout his work a credo of truth-telling about the past: we have a weighty obligation to discover, represent, and understand the circumstances of our past, even when those facts are deeply unpalatable. Myth-making about the past is not only bad history and bad politics, it is morally deficient.

This observation brings us to a final way in which moral questions arise in the context of honest history. The crimes of the past have consequences in the present. The facts of trans-Atlantic slavery continue to have consequences for millions of descendants of the men and women who were transported from Africa to the Americas; the facts of the Rwandan genocide have consequences for the living victims of these mass killings and their kin; and the fact of colonial exploitation of the Congo or southern Africa has consequences for the current poverty of much of Africa. Does knowledge of the crimes of the past create for the current generation an obligation of engagement in contributing actively to healing those wounds in the present and preventing their recurrence in the future? Does “truth and reconciliation” require more than simply recognizing ugly truths about the past? Does it require that we act differently, individually and collectively? It is of course a tragic and immutable reality of the human condition that the past cannot be changed; the murdered cannot be unmurdered, and the primary perpetrators of horrific crimes within a few generations are certainly beyond the reach of justice. The future is deeply contingent, while the past is fixed and unchangeable. But does this immutability imply that the present generation has no obligations created by past crimes? Or rather, does knowing the truth about our past create for us the obligation to learn from those tragic human actions how to avoid such crimes in the future? Does honest knowledge of the human crimes of the past bring with it an obligation to strive in good faith to address the consequences of those crimes in the present? Finally, can knowledge of history help us to become more empathetic, more just, and more farsighted in our dealings with each other in the grand affairs that make up future history? One would hope so; and perhaps this is the most pressing moral obligation of all that is created by our recognition of our own historicity.

Bibliography

  • Applebaum, Anne, 2003. Gulag: A history, New York: Doubleday
  • –––, 2017. Red famine: Stalin’s war on Ukraine, New York: Doubleday.
  • Anderson, Benedict R. O’G., 1983. Imagined communities Reflections on the origin and spread of nationalism, London: Verso.
  • Ankersmit, F. R., 1995. Language and historical experience, Bielefeld: ZiF.
  • Ankersmit, F. R., and Hans Kellner (eds.), 1995. A new philosophy of history, Chicago: University of Chicago Press.
  • Avineri, Shlomo, 1972. Hegel’s theory of the modern state (Cambridge studies in the history and theory of politics), London: Cambridge University Press.
  • Bentley, Michael (ed.), 1997. Companion to historiography, London; New York: Routledge.
  • Berkhofer, Robert F., 1995. Beyond the great story: history as text and discourse, Cambridge, MA: Belknap Press of Harvard University Press.
  • Berlin, Isaiah, 2000. Three critics of the Enlightenment: Vico, Hamann, Herder, H. Hardy (ed.), Princeton, NJ: Princeton University Press.
  • Bikont, Anna, 2015. The Crime and the silence: Confronting the massacre of Jews in wartime Jedwabne, Farrar Straus and Giroux.
  • Bloch, Marc, 1949 [1946]. Strange defeat: A statement of evidence written in 1940, translated by Gerard Hopkins, Oxford: Oxford University Press, 1946.
  • –––, 1953. The Historian’s Craft, New York: Knopf.
  • Bouton, Christophe, 2016. “The Critical Theory of History: Rethinking the Philosophy of History in the Light of Koselleck’s Work”, History and Theory, 55(2): 163–184.
  • Breisach, Ernst (ed.), 2007. Historiography: Ancient, medieval, and modern, 3rd edition, Chicago: University of Chicago Press.
  • Browning, Christopher R., 1992. Ordinary Men: Reserve Police Battalion 101 and the Final Solution in Poland, New York: HarperCollins.
  • Brunner, Otto, Werner Conze, and Reinhart Koselleck (eds.), 1972–97. Geschichtliche Grundbegriffe. Historisches Lexikon zur politisch-sozialen Sprache in Deutschland, 8 volumes, Stuttgart: Klett.
  • Burguière, André, 2009. The Annales School: An intellectual history, Ithaca, NY: Cornell University Press.
  • Collingwood, R. G., 1946. The idea of history, Oxford: Clarendon Press.
  • Condorcet, Jean-Antoine-Nicolas de Caritat, 1795 [1979]. Sketch for a historical picture of the progress of the human mind, Westport, CT: Greenwood Press, 1979.
  • Creyghton, Camille, Pieter Huistra, Sarah Keymeulen, and Herman Paul, 2016. “Virtue Language in Historical Scholarship: The Cases of Georg Waitz, Gabriel Mond and Henri Pirenne.” History of European Ideas, 42(7): 924–36.
  • Cronon, William, 1991. Nature’s metropolis: Chicago and the great west, New York: W. W. Norton.
  • Danto, Arthur Coleman, 1965. Analytical philosophy of history, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
  • Darnton, Robert, 1984. The great cat massacre and other episodes in French cultural history, New York: Basic Books.
  • Davidson, Donald, 1963. “Actions, Reasons, and Causes”, Journal of Philosophy, 60(23): 685–700.
  • Dawidowicz, Lucy S., 1975. The War against the Jews, 1933–1945, New York: Holt, Rinehart and Winston.
  • Dawson, Christopher, 1929. Progress and religion, an historical enquiry, New York: Sheed and Ward.
  • De Vries, Bert, and Johan Goudsblom, 2002. Mappae mundi: humans and their habitats in a long-term socio-ecological perspective: myths, maps and models, Amsterdam: Amsterdam University Press.
  • Diamond, Jared M., 1997. Guns, germs, and steel: The fates of human societies, 1st edition, New York: W.W. Norton.
  • Dilthey, Wilhelm, 1883 [1989]. Introduction to the human sciences, R. A. Makkreel and F. Rodi (eds.), Princeton, NJ: Princeton University Press, 1989.
  • –––, 1860–1903 [1996]. Hermeneutics and the study of history, R. A. Makkreel and F. Rodi (eds.), Princeton, NJ: Princeton University Press, 1996.
  • –––, 1910 [2002]. The formation of the historical world in the human sciences, R. A. Makkreel, F. Rodi and W. Dilthey (eds.), Princeton, NJ: Princeton University Press, 2002.
  • Donagan, Alan. 1966. “The Popper-Hempel Theory Reconsidered”, in Philosophical Analysis and History, W. H. Dray (ed.), New York: Harper & Row, pp. 127–159.
  • Dray, William, 1957. Laws and explanation in history, London: Oxford University Press.
  • –––, 1964. Philosophy of history, Englewood Cliffs, NJ: Prentice-Hall.
  • ––– (ed.), 1966. Philosophical analysis and history, New York: Harper & Row.
  • Elster, Jon, 1989. Nuts and bolts for the socialsciences, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
  • Fay, Brian (ed.), 2004. “Historians and Ethics”, History and Theory, 43 (Theme Issue).
  • Foucault, Michel, 1971. The order of things: An archaeology of the human sciences, 1st American edition, World of man, New York: Pantheon Books.
  • Gardiner, Patrick L., 1952. The nature of historical explanation, London: Oxford University Press.
  • ––– (ed.), 1974. The philosophy of history, London, New York: Oxford University Press.
  • Geertz, Clifford, 1980. Negara: The theatre state in Nineteenth-Century Bali, Princeton: Princeton University Press.
  • Goldhagen, Daniel Jonah, 1996. Hitler’s willing executioners: Ordinary germans and the Holocaust, 1st edition, New York: Knopf: Distributed by Random House.
  • Gross, Jan Tomasz, 2001. Neighbors: The destruction of the Jewish community in Jedwabne, Poland, Princeton: Princeton University Press.
  • Hacking, Ian, 1999. The social construction of what?, Cambridge, MA: Harvard University Press.
  • –––. 2002. Historical ontology, Cambridge, MA, London: Harvard University Press.
  • Hart, H. L. A., and Tony Honoré, 1959. Causation in the law, Oxford: Clarendon Press.
  • Hedström, Peter, and Richard Swedberg (eds.), 1998. Social mechanisms: An analytical approach to social theory, Studies in rationality and social change, Cambridge, New York: Cambridge University Press.
  • Hegel, Georg Wilhelm Friedrich, 1824a [1953]. Reason in history, a general introduction to the philosophy of history, New York: Liberal Arts Press, 1953.
  • –––, 1824b [1956]. The philosophy of history, New York: Dover Publications, 1956.
  • –––, 1821 [1967]. The philosophy of right, T. M. Knox (ed.), London, New York,: Oxford University Press, 1967.
  • –––, 1857 [1975]. Lectures on the philosophy of world history, translated by H. B. Nisbet, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 1975.
  • –––, 1807 [1977]. Phenomenology of spirit, translated by A. V. Miller, edited by J. N. Findlay, Oxford: Clarendon Press, 1977.
  • Herder, Johann Gottfried, 1791 [1968]. Reflections on the philosophy of the history of mankind, F. E. Manuel (ed.), Classic European historians, Chicago: University of Chicago Press, 1968.
  • –––, 1800–1877 [1996]. On world history: An anthology, H. Adler and E. A. Menze (eds.), Sources and studies in world history, Armonk, NY: M.E. Sharpe, 1996.
  • Hilberg, Raul, 1961. The Destruction of the European Jews, Chicago: Quadrangle Books.
  • Hinton, William, 1966. Fanshen: A documentary of revolution in a Chinese village, New York: Vintage Books.
  • Huang, Philip C., 1990. The peasant family and rural development in the Yangzi Delta, 1350–1988, Stanford: Stanford University Press.
  • Hume, David, 1754–1762 [1983]. The history of England, W. B. Todd (ed.), 6 volumes, Indianapolis: Liberty Classics, 1983.
  • Judt, Tony, 1992. “The Past Is Another Country: Myth and Memory in Postwar Europe”, Daedalus, 121(4): 83–118.
  • –––, 2006. Postwar: A history of Europe since 1945, New York: Penguin Books.
  • Kammen, Michael G., 1991. Mystic chords of memory: The transformation of tradition in American culture, 1st edition, New York: Knopf.
  • Kant, Immanuel, 1784–6 [1963]. On history, L. W. Beck (ed.), Indianapolis: Bobbs-Merrill, 1963.
  • –––, 1784–5 [1990]. Foundations of the metaphysics of morals and, What is enlightenment, 2nd revised edition, The Library of liberal arts, New York: Macmillan, 1990.
  • Kojève, Alexandre, 1969. Introduction to the reading of Hegel, R. Queneau (ed.), New York: Basic Books.
  • Koselleck, Reinhart, 1988 [1959]. Critique And crisis: Enlightenment and the parthogenesis of modern society, Oxford: Berg, 1959.
  • –––, 2002. The practice of conceptual history: Timing history, spacing concepts, Stanford: Stanford University Press.
  • –––, 2004. Futures and past: On the semantics of historical time, New York: Columbia University Press.
  • LaCapra, Dominick, 1994. Representing the Holocaust: History, theory, trauma, Ithaca, NY: Cornell University Press.
  • –––, 1998. History and memory after Auschwitz, Ithaca, NY: Cornell University Press.
  • Lattimore, Owen, 1932. Manchuria: Cradle of Conflict, New York: Macmillan.
  • Leibniz, Gottfried Wilhelm, 1709 [1985]. Theodicy: Essays on the goodness of God, the freedom of man, and the origin of evil, A. M. Farrer (ed.), La Salle, IL: Open Court, 1985.
  • Le Roy Ladurie, Emmanuel, 1979. Montaillou, the promised land of error, New York: Vintage.
  • Little, Daniel, 2010. New contributions to the philosophy of history, Dordrecht: Springer Science.
  • –––, 2017. “Microfoundations”, in The Routledge Companion to Philosophy of Social Science, edited by Lee McIntyre and Alex Rosenberg. London; New York: Routledge, pp. 228–239.
  • –––, 2018. “Disaggregating Historical Explanation: The Move to Social Mechanisms”, in Routledge Handbook of Mechanisms and Mechanical Philosophy, edited by Stuart Glennan and Phyllis Illari, New York: Routledge, pp. 413–422.
  • Livi-Bacci, Massimo, 2007. A concise history of world population, 4th edition, Malden, MA: Blackwell.
  • Mackie, J. L., 1965. “Causes and Conditions”, American Philosophical Quarterly, 2: 245–264.
  • –––, 1974. The cement of the universe; a study of causation, Oxford: Clarendon Press.
  • Mandelbaum, Maurice, 1971. History, man, & reason; A study in nineteenth-century thought, Baltimore: Johns Hopkins Press.
  • Mann, Michael, 1986. The sources of social power. A history of power from the beginning to A.D. 1760, Volume 1, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
  • Maritain, Jacques, 1957. On the philosophy of history, New York: Scribner.
  • Marx, Karl, 1852 [2005]. The eighteenth Brumaire of Louis Bonaparte, New York: Mondial, 2005
  • Marx, Karl, and Frederick Engels, 1848 [1974]. The Communist Manifesto, in The Revolutions of 1848: Political Writings (Volume 1), D. Fernbach (ed.), New York: Penguin Classics, 1974, pp. 62–98.
  • –––, 1845–49 [1970]. The German ideology, 3rd revised edition. Moscow: Progress Publishers, 1970.
  • McNeill, William, 1976. Plagues and peoples, Garden City: Doubleday.
  • Mink, Louis O., 1966. “The autonomy of historical understanding”d,. History and Theory, 5(1): 24–47.
  • Mink, Louis O., Brian Fay, Eugene O. Golob, and Richard T. Vann (eds.), 1987. Historical understanding, Ithaca, NY: Cornell University Press.
  • Momigliano, Arnaldo, 1990. The classical foundations of modern historiography (Sather Classical Lectures), Berkeley: University of California Press.
  • Montesquieu, Charles de Secondat, 1748. The spirit of the laws, A. M. Cohler, B. C. Miller and H. Stone (eds.), Cambridge texts in the history of political thought, Cambridge, New York: Cambridge University Press, 1989.
  • Nagel, Ernest, 1961. The structure of science; problems in the logic of scientific explanation, New York: Harcourt Brace & World.
  • O’Brien, Dennis, 1975. Hegel on reason and history: A contemporary interpretation, Chicago: University of Chicago Press.
  • O’Brien, P. K., and C. Keyder, 1978. Economic growth in Britain and France, 1780–1914, London: Allen and Unwin.
  • Olson, Niklas, 2012. History in the plural: An introduction to the work of Reinhart Koselleck, New York: Berghahn Books.
  • Outhwaite, William, 1975. Understanding social life: The method called verstehen, London: George Allen & Unwin.
  • Pankakoski, Timo, 2010. “Conflict, Context, Concreteness: Koselleck and Schmitt on Concepts”, Political Theory, 38(6): 749–779.
  • Passmore, J. A., 1966. “The Objectivity of History”, in Philosophical Analysis and History, W. H. Dray (ed.), New York: Harper & Row, pp. 75–94.
  • Paul, Herman, 2015. Key issues in historical theory, London; New York: Routledge.
  • Pierson, Paul, 2004. Politics in Time: History, institutions, and social analysis, Princeton: Princeton University Press.
  • Pompa, Leon, 1990. Human nature and historical knowledge: Hume, Hegel, and Vico, Cambridge, New York: Cambridge University Press.
  • Prusin, Alexander Victor, 2010. The lands between: Conflict in the East European borderlands, 1870–1992, Oxford, New York: Oxford University Press.
  • Rabinbach, Anson, Stephanos Geroulanos, and Dagmar Herzog, 2020. Staging the Third Reich: Essays in cultural and intellectual history, London; New York: Routledge/Tayor & Francis Group.
  • Ranke, Leopold von, 1881 [1973]. The theory and practice of history, W. Humboldt (ed.), The European historiography series, Indianapolis, IN: Bobbs-Merrill, 1973.
  • Ricoeur, Paul, 2004. Memory, history, forgetting, translated by Kathleen Blamey and David Pellauer, Chicago: University of Chicago Press.
  • –––, 1984, 1985, 1988 Time and narrative (Volumes 1–3) , translated by Kathleen McLaughlin and David Pellauer, Chicago: University of Chicago Press.
  • Rorty, Richard, 1979. Philosophy and the mirror of nature, Princeton: Princeton University Press.
  • Rousseau, Jean Jacques, 1762a [1983]. On the social contract ; Discourse on the origin of inequality; Discourse on political economy, Indianapolis, IN: Hackett Publishing Co., 1983
  • Rousseau, Jean-Jacques, 1762b [2003]. Emile, or, Treatise on education, Amherst, NY: Prometheus Books.
  • Rowe, William T., 2007. “Owen Lattimore, Asia, and Comparative History”, Journal of Asian Studies, 66(3): 759–786.
  • Rust, Eric Charles, 1947. The Christian understanding of history, London: Lutterworth Press.
  • Sachsenmaier, Dominic, 2011. Global perspectives on global history: Theories and approaches in a connected world, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
  • Said, Edward W., 1978. Orientalism, New York: Random House.
  • Schama, Simon, 1991. Dead certainties: Unwarranted speculations, 1st edition, New York: Knopf.
  • Schleiermacher, Friedrich, 1838 [1998]. Hermeneutics and criticism and other writings, A. Bowie (ed.), Cambridge, New York: Cambridge University Press, 1998.
  • Scriven, Michael, 1962. “Explanations, Predictions, and Laws”, in Minnesota Studies in the Philosophy of Science (Volume 3), H. Feigl and G. Maxwell (eds.), Minneapolis: University of Minnesota Press, pp. 170–230/
  • Sherratt, Yvonne, 2006. Continental philosophy of social science: Hermeneutics, genealogy, critical theory, Cambridge, New York: Cambridge University Press.
  • Skinner, G. William, 1977. “Regional Urbanization in Nineteenth-Century China”, in In The City in Late Imperial China, G. W. Skinner (ed.), Stanford: Stanford University Press, p. 211–249.
  • Smith, Adam, 1776 [1976]. An inquiry into the nature and causes of the wealth of nations, R. H. Campbell and A. S. Skinner (eds.), Glasgow edition of the works and correspondence of Adam Smith, Oxford: Clarendon Press, 1976.
  • Snyder, Timothy, 2010. Bloodlands: Europe between Hitler and Stalin, New York: Basic Books.
  • –––, 2015. Black Earth: The Holocaust as history and warning, New York: Tim Duggan Books.
  • Solzhenitsyn, Aleksandr Isaevich, 1974. The Gulag Archipelago, 1918–1956: An Experiment in Literary Investigation, New York: Harper & Row.
  • Spengler, Oswald, and Charles Francis Atkinson, 1934. The decline of the west, New York: A.A. Knopf.
  • Taylor, Charles, 1975. Hegel, Cambridge; New York: Cambridge University Press.
  • –––, 1985. “Interpretation and the Sciences of Man”, in Philosophy and the Human Sciences: Philosophical Papers 2, C. Taylor (ed.), Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, pp. 15–57.
  • Toynbee, Arnold Joseph, 1934. A study of history, London: Oxford University Press.
  • Tucker, Aviezer (ed.), 2009. A companion to the philosophy of history and historiography, Chichester, U.K., Malden, MA: Wiley-Blackwell.
  • Vico, Giambattista, 1725. The first new science, L. Pompa (ed.), Cambridge texts in the history of political thought, Cambridge, New York: Cambridge University Press, 2002.
  • Waldron, Arthur, 1990. The Great Wall of China: From history to myth, Cambridge, New York: Cambridge University Press.
  • Walsh, William Henry, 1960 [1951]. Philosophy of history: An introduction, New York: Harper, 1951.
  • Whatmore, Richard and Brian Young (eds.), 2015. A companion to intellectual history, New York: Wiley Blackwell.
  • White, Hayden V., 1973. Metahistory: The historical imagination in nineteenth-century Europe, Baltimore: Johns Hopkins University Press.
  • Wittfogel, Karl, 1935. “The Stages of Development in Chinese Economic and Social History”, in The Asiatic Mode of Production: Science and Politics, A. M. Bailey and J. R. Llobera (ed.), London: Routledge and Kegan Paul, 1981, pp. 113–40.
  • Wong, R. Bin, 1997. China transformed: Historical change and the limits of European experience, Ithaca, NY: Cornell University Press.
  • Wylegala, Anna, 2017. “Managing the Difficult Past: Ukrainian Collective Memory and Public Debates on History”, Nationalities Papers, 45(5): 780–97.
  • Zahle Julie and Finn Collin, eds., 2014. Individualism, holism, explanation and emergence, Dordrecht, London, New York: Springer.

Other Internet Resources

Acknowledgments

Acknowledgement is offered to Christopher Bouton for valuable feedback on section 2.5.

Copyright © 2020 by
Daniel Little <delittle@umd.umich.edu>

Open access to the SEP is made possible by a world-wide funding initiative.
The Encyclopedia Now Needs Your Support
Please Read How You Can Help Keep the Encyclopedia Free