## Notes to Independence Friendly Logic

1. The work of providing solid foundations to analysis was initiated by Augustin Cauchy (1789–1857).

2.
For references to
uses of the device ‘depends on…but not on…’ in actual
mathematical literature, see Dechesne (2005), Hintikka (1996), Hintikka
& Kulas (1983), Hodges (1997a, 1997b), Mann *et al.* (2011), Mostowski & Krynicki
(1995), Pietarinen (2001); for dependent quantifiers, see also Quine
(1970).

3. In order to properly assess the origins of IF first-order logic in light of available documents, also the following should be noted. Hintikka writes (1991: 7): ‘IF first-order languages are introduced and studied in my paper, "What is Elementary Logic?" (forthcoming).’ This paper appeared as Hintikka (1995). Hintikka (1991: 8,67) refers to the papers published in Sandu’s Ph.D. thesis, saying that in them Sandu has also studied independence friendly languages; he mentions specifically Sandu’s study of informationally independent connectives in Sandu & Väänänen (1992), as well as Hintikka & Sandu (1989). In Hintikka & Sandu (1997: 368) it is stated that IF languages were introduced in Hintikka & Sandu (1989) – contradicting what is said in Hintikka (1991). Hintikka (1996: 52) mentions Sandu (1993) and Hintikka (1995) as sources for earlier discussions on IF first-order logic; Hintikka & Sandu (1989) is not mentioned. In Sandu & Hyttinen (2001: 37) it is said that IF first-order languages were introduced in Hintikka (1996), but on the next page it is affirmed that these languages were introduced in Hintikka & Sandu (1989).

The slash notation used for indicating quantifier independence appears already in Hintikka (1988: 22). A general notation for separately indicating those preceding operators of which a given one is independent – more general than the notation of partially ordered quantifiers – was proposed in connection with epistemic logic even earlier, in Hintikka (1982: 164).

4.
Thoralf Skolem
(1887–1963) introduced Skolem functions in Skolem (1920). For
uses of Skolem functions in model theory, see *e.g.* Hodges (1993). They
have also found use in automated theorem proving; cf. Portoraro’s entry
on
Automated Reasoning
in this
encyclopedia. On how they are employed in linguistics, cf. footnote
90.

5.
*I.e.*, a function
with zero arguments.

6. Here and henceforth, ‘iff’ abbreviates ‘if and only if.’

7. The function \(f\) yields a witness for \(\exists y\) depending on the interpretation of \(\forall x\), and similarly \(g\) provides a witness for \(\exists w\) depending on the interpretation of \(\forall z\).

8.
Henkin introduced
the general idea of *dependent quantifier*
\(Q_{m, n, d}\), which in effect
leads to the notion of (arbitrary) partially ordered quantifier
(p.o.q.) with \(m\) universal quantifiers and \(n\)
existential quantifiers, where \(d\) is a function that
determines for each existential quantifier on which universal
quantifiers it depends; \(m\) and \(n\) may be any cardinal
numbers. The notion of finite p.o.q. results by letting \(m\) and
\(n\) be finite. Well-known papers on finite p.o.q.s include
Enderton (1970), Walkoe (1970), Barwise (1979), Krynicki & Lachlan
(1979), Blass & Gurevich (1986), Krynicki (1993); for an overview,
see Krynicki & Mostowski (1995). In Barwise (1979)
*generalized* partially ordered quantifiers were also
studied.

9.
\(\mathbf{FPO}\) is *not* syntactically closed under
negation, conjunction, or disjunction.

10. For a critique, see Hodges (2013), Marion (2009).

11.
Let us agree
that player 1 is male (‘he’) and player 2 female (‘she’). In the
literature, the players have been called by many names: *Myself*
(or \(I)\) and *Nature*, \(\exists\) and \(\forall\),
*Eloise* and *Abelard*, as well as the *initial
Verifier* and the *initial Falsifier* (by reference to the
players’ initial roles).

12. Henceforth, whenever \(M\) is a model, M is its domain.

13. Note that while quantifier moves pertain to ‘objects out there’ (elements of the domain), moves for conjunction and disjunction concern syntactic items (conjuncts and disjuncts).

14. For abstract and strategic meaning, cf. also Hintikka & Sandu (1997: 397–398). For research on GTS and natural language, see Saarinen (1979), Hintikka & Sandu (1991), Sandu (1991), Pietarinen (2001), Clark (2012); Hintikka & Sandu (1997) offers an overview.

15.
In any event,
this is the way in which Hintikka uses the word ‘Skolem function,’ see,
*e.g.*, Hintikka (1996: 31; 2002). Cf. Sandu (2001), where ‘two ways of
Skolemizing’ are discussed. One of the two ways corresponds to
Hintikka’s notion of Skolem function, the other corresponding to a
generalized notion of strategy function. What results from the latter
choice is, in Hodges’s terminology, a slash logic, not an IF logic;
cf. the quote below.

16. Excluding slash logic
still underdetermines the choice between several proposed
formulations of IF first-order logic. However, all these formulations
use in their semantics Skolem functions, or strategy functions all of
whose arguments are moves by the opponent. Publications in which a
slash logic is actually formulated – yet referred to as an IF
logic – include Hyttinen & Sandu (2000), Pietarinen (2001),
Väänänen (2002), Sandu (2007), Caicedo *et al.*
(2009) and Mann *et al.* (2011).

17. For the term
‘regular formula,’ see Caicedo *et al.* (2009). The
logical symbols of first-order logic considered here are negation \(({\sim})\),
disjunction \((\vee)\), conjunction \((\wedge)\), existential quantifier
\((\exists)\), universal quantifier \((\forall)\), and parentheses. See Shapiro’s entry on
Classical Logic
in this encyclopedia for a detailed presentation of
first-order logic.

Note that implication is not among the logical symbols of IF
first-order logic. Material implication \((\phi \rightarrow \psi)\) can be
defined in the so-called extended \(\mathbf{IFL}\) (*Subsect*.
3.4) by the formula \((\neg \phi \vee \psi)\). In the special case that
\(\phi\) is ‘truth equivalent’ to a first-order formula (see
*Subsect.* 4.2), it is possible to express \((\phi \rightarrow \psi)\)
in \(\mathbf{IFL}\) by the formula \(({\sim}\phi \vee \psi)\). For
different ways of treating conditionals in GTS, including conditionals
in natural language, see *e.g.* Hintikka & Kulas (1983; *Ch.*
3), Hintikka & Sandu (1991).

18. In the literature,
the syntax of \(\mathbf{IFL}\) is invariably given
for *formulas*. By contrast, the semantics is often formulated
for *sentences* only (see Hintikka 1991, 1995, 1996; Hintikka
& Sandu 1996, 1997; Sandu 1993, 1994). In Sandu (1996, 1998), the
semantics is given for arbitrary formulas.

19.
See, *e.g.*,
Hintikka (1991, 1995, 1996), Sandu (1993, 1994); for defining GTS for
\(\mathbf{FO}\) in this way, see *e.g.* Hintikka & Kulas (1983),
cf. Hintikka (1968, 1973a). The semantics of \(\mathbf{IFL}\) to be
presented will be its game-theoretical semantics, sketched in Hintikka
& Sandu (1989) and Hintikka (1991) and presented in a more detailed
fashion *e.g.* in Hintikka (1995, 1996), Sandu (1993, 1994). The
semantics is defined explicitly to arbitrary formulas and variable
assignments in Sandu (1996, 1998). The original approach to the GTS of
first-order logic in Hintikka (1968) avoided variable assignments by
letting the players name the objects they had chosen; this approach
could be adapted to \(\mathbf{IFL}\) as well. Janssen
(2002) and Janssen & Dechesne (2006) address the issue of whether
the game-theoretical semantics of \(\mathbf{IFL}\) does justice to
the idea of ‘informational independence’ among logical operators.

20.
Models \((\tau\)
structures) are termed *interpretations* in Shapiro’s entry
on
Classical Logic
in this encyclopedia.
Recall that in the degenerate case that \(n = 0\), the expression
\((\exists x/\forall y_1 ,\ldots ,\forall y_n)\)
equals by stipulation \((\exists x)\), and
similarly in the case of the other connectives followed by a slash.
This is why we need not give separate clauses for \((\exists x),
\vee , (\forall x)\), and \(\wedge\).

21.
The notion of
the strategy of a player must not be confused with the game-theoretical
notion of *strategy profile*. The latter means a set of
strategies, one strategy for each player. For semantic games, a
strategy profile would be a set
\(\{F_1, F_2\}\), where each
\(F_i\) itself is a set, namely a set of
strategy functions of player \(i\).

22.
The term
‘dissatisfaction’ is used as a dual of ‘satisfaction.’ The distinction
between these notions generalizes the distinction between ‘truth’ and
‘falsity.’ Hodges (1997a) conceptualizes a related distinction in his compositional
framework by speaking of ‘trumps’ and ‘cotrumps.’
Hintikka (1996, *Ch.* 10) proposed that a ‘constructive’ interpretation could be given to IF logic by requiring that winning strategies be composed of *recursive* strategy functions. This idea is developed in detail in Odintsov *et al.* (2018).

23. To be precise, below game \(G(\phi , M)\) equals by definition game \(G(\phi , M, g_0)\), where \(g_0\) is an arbitrarily chosen variable assignment.

24. When negation symbol
is allowed to appear in arbitrary syntactic positions
in \(\mathbf{FO}\) formulas, it is no longer the case that
universal quantifiers and conjunction symbols are automatically
of *universal force* while existential quantifiers and
disjunction symbols are of *existential force*. The force of an
operator depends on the number of negation signs in whose syntactic
scope it lies. If we wish to retain in the general setting the
characteristic feature distinguishing \(\mathbf{IFL}\) from slash
logic – namely the requirement that strategy functions of a
player only take as arguments moves made by the adversary – the
syntax must be formulated paying attention to the force that each
quantifier has (cf. however Sandu 1993, 1994; Hintikka & Sandu
1997: 373). In the general formulation of \(\mathbf{IFL}\), hence
formulated, an operator O can be marked as independent from any
preceding quantifiers of the *opposite force*, but not from any
preceding quantifier having the same force as O. For example
\((\forall x){\sim}(\exists y)(\forall z/\forall x,\exists y) S(x, y, z)\)
would be well formed, unlike
\({\sim}(\forall x){\sim}(\exists y/\forall x)
R(x, y)\).

25.
See *e.g.*
Hintikka (1991: 147, 2002: 409), Hodges (1997a: 546), Sandu (1993,
1994).

26. For non-determinacy and IF logic, see Hintikka (1996), Burgess (2003), Väänänen (2006).

27. No third truth-value is stipulated in the semantics of \(\mathbf{IFL}\). Truth-value gaps may arise when neither truth nor falsity can be meaningfully ascribed to a sentence (because a presupposition of the sentence is not satisfied). This is not what non-determinacy means. Non-determinacy is a model-relative complex negative property, which can be ascribed to a sentence. A sentence has this property iff neither of the simple positive properties of truth and falsity can be correctly ascribed to the sentence. An ascription of non-determinacy is correct or incorrect depending exclusively on the model relative to which the ascription is effected.

28. For ‘truth
equivalence’ Hintikka uses the term ‘weak
equivalence’ and for ‘logical equivalence’ the term
‘strong equivalence’ (cf. Hintikka 1996: 150). He
characterizes strong equivalence as the preservation of truth and
falsity. Thus if \(\psi\) and \(\chi\) are strongly equivalent, nothing
prevents \(\psi\) from being non-determined in a model, as long as \(\chi\)
also is. (On other occasions, *e.g.* in Hintikka 1991: 20,
Hintikka defines ‘strong equivalence’ differently, by the
requirement that either \(\psi\) and \(\chi\) are both true or both false;
this precludes the possibility that one or both of two strongly
equivalent sentences would be non-determined.) The term ‘truth
equivalence’ used by Dechesne (2005: 32) is more
descriptive. The term ‘falsity equivalence’ also stems
from Dechesne. She follows Hintikka in terming ‘strong
equivalence’ what is here for simplicity referred to as
‘logical equivalence’.

29. Cf. Hintikka (1996: 147), Hodges (1997a: 546), Sandu (1993, 1994).

30. In Hintikka (1996:
149) this logic is termed *truth-functionally extended IF
first-order logic* – in contradistinction to ‘extended
IF first-order logic,’ which in Hintikka (1991: 47, 1996: 149)
and Hintikka & Sandu (1997) is defined as containing, in addition
to \(\mathbf{IFL}\) formulas, only formulas \(\neg \phi\), where
\(\phi\) is an \(\mathbf{IFL}\) formula (or sentence). The
considerations that motivate the introduction of \(\neg\) in the first
place, actually call for the more general syntax (witness Hintikka
1996: 149, 195–196), which is why it is natural to define
extended IF first-order logic as it is done here. For extended IF
first-order logic, see also Hintikka (1991: 49; 1997; 2004).

31. Cf. Hintikka (1991: 49; 1996: 147–149; 2002), Hintikka & Sandu (1997: 375), Sandu (1993, 1994).

32. Cf. Hintikka (1991,
1995, 1996, 1997), Hintikka & Sandu (1996), Sandu (1993, 1996,
1998). Analogous properties of (what on substantial criteria is) slash
logic are discussed in Sandu (2007) and Mann *et al.* (2011);
recall Hodges’s distinction between independence friendly logic and
slash logic (see the beginning of *Sect.* 3). Properties of
another related logic, Väänänen’s dependence logic, are
in a mathematically detailed fashion covered in
Väänänen (2007).

33. For (existential) second-order logic, see Enderton’s entry on Second-order and Higher-order Logic in this encyclopedia. See also van Benthem and Doets (2001).

34. For moree, see the entry on The Axiom of Choice.

35. In Hodges (2006: 527;
2013), it is pointed out that a strengthened version of this
theorem can be proven if a weakened notion of strategy is applied
(cf. also Hintikka 2006a: 536). Related observations are made in
Forster (2006). Namely, the standard notion of strategy employed in
GTS is that of *deterministic* strategy: a set of single-valued
functions yielding for any given tuple of arguments a unique move. A
*nondeterministic* strategy of player 2 consists of a set of
instructions, each instruction yielding a *set* of moves for any
tuple of earlier moves by player 1. A nondeterministic strategy of
player 2 is *winning* if it guarantees a win for player 2,
regardless of which move, among those given by the strategy, player 2
makes in each case when it is her turn to move.

Theorem (without AC).(Hodges 2013) Let \(\tau\) be any vocabulary, \(M\) any \(\tau\) structure, \(g\) any variable assignment and \(\phi\) any \(\mathbf{FO}[\tau\)] formula. Then \(M, g \vDash \phi\) holds in the standard sense iff there is a nondeterministic winning strategy for player 2 in game \(G(\phi , M, g)\).

For finite partially ordered quantifiers and AC, see Krynicki &
Mostowski (1995; *Sect.* 2).

36.
The
intertranslatability of the two logics is discussed in Hintikka (1991,
1996, 1997), Hintikka & Sandu (1997), Sandu (1998).

37.
A Hamiltonian
path on a graph is a path visiting every node exactly once. For Fagin’s
theorem and references to \(\mathbf{NP}\)-complete problems, see
*e.g.* Ebbinghaus & Flum (1999), Grädel *et al.* (2007),
Papadimitriou (1994). For partially ordered quantifiers, partially
ordered connectives, and \(\mathbf{NP}\)-complete problems, see
Blass & Gurevich (1986), Hella & Sandu (1995).

38. If \(\phi\) and \(\psi\) are \(\mathbf{IFL}\) formulas, let us write \((\phi \rightarrow \psi)\) for \(({\sim}\phi \vee \psi)\), and \((\phi \leftrightarrow \psi)\) for \(((\phi \rightarrow \psi) \wedge(\psi \rightarrow \phi))\); cf. footnote 17.

39. For a discussion, see
Hintikka (1991, 1995, 1996), Hintikka & Sandu (1997), Sandu
(1993). Paying due attention to Hodges’s warning against confusing
slash logic and IF logic, one may reconstruct proofs for various
properties of \(\mathbf{IFL}\) on the basis of
Väänänen’s results concerning his dependence logic
(Väänänen 2007). The results pertaining to (what in
substance is) slash logic discussed in (Sandu 2007) and in
(Mann *et al.* 2011) can likewise be compared to the analogous
results concerning \(\mathbf{IFL}\).

40.
A complete
disproof procedure is a procedure for recursively enumerating all
inconsistent sentences. The term ‘complete proof procedure for
inconsistency’ might involve a smaller risk of being misunderstood
(cf., *e.g.*, Quine 1970: 90). In any event, disproving must be
understood as ‘establishing inconsistent,’ not as ‘establishing not
provable’ (or ‘establishing not valid’).

41.
For the fact
that \(\mathbf{ESO}\) is not closed under negation, cf. *e.g.*
Hinman (1978: 82).

42. For a proof phrased in terms of \(\mathbf{FPO}\), see Barwise (1979: 56, 73–74).

43. Actually, it is non-determined in all domains with at least two elements.

44.
Fragments of
\(\mathbf{ESO}\) are subject to lively interest in finite model
theory and complexity theory, see *e.g.* Ebbinghaus & Flum
(1999), Grädel *et al.* (2007), Papadimitriou (1994). For
related work on partially ordered quantifiers and connectives, see
Blass & Gurevich (1986), Hella & Sandu (1995), Hella,
Sevenster & Tulenheimo (2008). For the \(\mathbf{P} = \mathbf{NP}\) problem, see *e.g.* Fortnow (2009).

45.
That there is
a sound and complete proof procedure for \(\mathbf{FO}\) was first
proven by Kurt Gödel (1930). There are different variants of
axiomatizability. Let \(L\) be a logic, \(A\) a set of
sentences of \(L\), and \(P\) a proof procedure for
\(L\). Then \(A\) is an *axiomatization* of \(L\)
relative to \(P\), if the sentences of \(L\) provable in
\(P\) from the sentences of \(A\) are precisely the valid
sentences of \(L\). The logic \(L\) is *finitely
axiomatizable* (resp. *recursively axiomatizable,* resp.
*axiomatizable*) relative to \(P\), if it has a finite
(*resp.* recursive, *resp.* recursively enumerable)
axiomatization \(A\) relative to \(P\).

46. See Hintikka (1991, 1995, 1996, 2000).

47. The theorem was proven by Boris Trakhtenbrot (1950). For Trakhtenbrot’s theorem, see Ebbinghaus, Flum & Thomas (1984). Andrzej Mostowski (1957) proved, without recourse to Trakhtenbrot’s theorem, that extending \(\mathbf{FO}\) with a quantifier capable of saying that a formula of one free variable is satisfied by finitely many elements only, results in a logic that is not axiomatizable.

48.
The fact that
\(\mathbf{FPO}\) fails to have a sound and complete proof procedure
can be seen by reference to Trakhtenbrot’s theorem. In 1958 Ehrenfeucht
showed that \(\phi_{inf}\) can be expressed in
\(\mathbf{FPO}\); see Henkin (1961). From this he concluded –
making use of Mostowski’s result mentioned in footnote
47
– that the Boolean
closure of \(\mathbf{FPO}\) (*i.e.*, its closure under the operations
\(\neg , \wedge\), and \(\vee)\) is not axiomatizable. From Mostowski’s result
the non-axiomatizability of \(\mathbf{FPO}\) itself does
*not* follow (since the finiteness of an extension is not
expressible in \(\mathbf{FPO})\).

49.
See *e.g.*
Hintikka (2006a: 65), Sandu & Hintikka (2001: 49). For
compositionality and GTS, see Hintikka & Kulas (1983), Hintikka
& Sandu (1997). For a discussion on different senses of
compositionality and \(\mathbf{IFL}\), see Hintikka (1996), Sandu
& Hintikka (2001). Cf. also Szabó’s entry on
Compositionality
in this
encyclopedia.

50.
See *e.g.*
Hintikka & Kulas (1983), Hintikka (1988, 1996, 2000, 2006a).

51.
See *e.g.*
Hintikka & Kulas (1983), Hintikka (1988, 1996, 2000).

52.
See *e.g.*
Hintikka & Kulas (1983), Hintikka (1988, 1996, 2000), Hintikka
& Sandu (1997).

53.
See *e.g.*
Hintikka & Kulas (1983), Hintikka (1988, 1995, 1996).

54. Barwise (1979) suggested that a compositional semantics must satisfy the condition that the relation ‘\(M \vDash \phi\)’ be an inductive verifiability relation in the sense of Barwise & Moschovakis (1978). He proved that \(\mathbf{FPO}\) does not admit of a compositional semantics subject to this condition. Hodges (1997a) finds the condition suggested by Barwise unmotivated. It rather begs the question: in order for a relation to be an inductive verifiability relation, the relevant inductive clauses must be first-order. That they cannot be first-order in connection with \(\mathbf{FPO}\) is hardly surprising; cf. Hodges (2007: 118).

Hintikka had on many occasions stated that there is no realistic
hope of formulating compositional truth-conditions for \(\mathbf{IFL}\)
sentences (Hintikka 1991, 1995, 1996; see also Hintikka & Sandu
1997). Hodges (1997a,b) wanted to prove Hintikka’s statement wrong. The
syntax Hodges opted for is that of slash logic (cf. *Sect*. 3 and *Subsect*. 6.1).
Since Hodges considers variants of slash logic, his results
are not, strictly speaking, about \(\mathbf{IFL}\). However, it is
clear that the framework of Hodges (1997b) can be adapted to the syntax
of \(\mathbf{IFL}\) proper.

55. It was pointed out already in Hintikka & Kulas (1983: 20) that at least in some cases compositionality can be restored by resorting to higher-order entities, specifically to functions embodying strategies of player 2. In the same connection it was noted that such higher-order entities are much less realistic philosophically and psycholinguistically than the original individuals. See also Zadrozny (1995), Janssen (1997), Hodges (1998); cf. Westerståhl (1998), Sandu & Hintikka (2001).

56. Note that \((N, \TRUE^N)\) is an expansion of \(N\) to the vocabulary \(\tau \cup \{\TRUE\}\).

57.
For details
about truth-definitions of \(\mathbf{FO}\), see Hodges’s entry
on
Tarski’s Truth Definitions
in this
encyclopedia; further, see *e.g.* Kaye (1991), Sandu (1998),
Väänänen (2007).

58. The proof of this result is sketched in Hintikka (1991, 1996), and later in more detail in Sandu (1998). See also Hintikka (1998, 2001), Hyttinen & Sandu (2000), Sandu & Hyttinen (2001), Väänänen (2007). For a technically analogous result, see Hodges’s comments about self-applied truth-predicates for \(\Sigma_n\) formulas in Azriel Levy’s set-theoretical hierarchy (Hodges’s entry on Tarski’s Truth Definitions in this encyclopedia); see also de Rouilhan and Bozon’s (2006: 700) comments about John Myhill’s and Craig Smorynski’s similar results.

59. If one attempts to construct Liar’s paradox for \(\mathbf{IFL}\), the assertion that the Liar sentence is true will itself be non-determined (Hintikka 1991: 44–51, 1996: 142; cf. Väänänen 2007: 108–109).

60. See also Hintikka (1996: 106–108; 2001: 23–24; 2006a: 65–66).

61. See Hintikka (1996: 123–125; 2001), Hintikka & Sandu (1997).

62.
Enderton (1970) proved that the logic \(L^*\) obtained
from \(\mathbf{FO}\) by closing it under arbitrary Henkin
quantifiers, as well as under the operations \(\neg , \wedge\), and \(\vee\),
can be translated into the so-called \(\Delta^1_2\)
fragment of second-order logic. (For this fragment, see, *e.g.*,
Hinman 1978.) Marcin Mostowski (1991) showed that in fact \(L^*\)
does not suffice to cover \(\Delta^1_2\);
cf. Krynicki & Mostowski (1995: 217). Now,
(1) \(\mathbf{EIFL}\) has the same expressive power as the Boolean
closure of \(\mathbf{ESO}\) (*i.e.*, its closure under \(\neg ,
\wedge\), and \(\vee)\), (2) the Boolean closure of \(\mathbf{ESO}\) has
the same expressive power as the Boolean closure
of \(\mathbf{FPO}\), and (3) the Boolean closure
of \(\mathbf{FPO}\) is a fragment of \(L^*\). Therefore we may
conclude that \(\mathbf{EIFL}\) is strictly weaker than the
\(\Delta^1_2\) fragment of second-order logic.

63. The standard interpretation in the sense of Henkin (1950) construes second-order quantifiers as follows. If \(R\) is an \(n\)-ary relation symbol, \(f\) is an \(n\)-ary function symbol, and \(\rM\) is a domain, then under the standard interpretation of second-order logic, the second-order quantifiers \((\exists R)\) and \((\forall R)\) range over all (extensionally possible) subsets of \(\rM^n\), and the second-order quantifiers \((\exists f)\) and \((\forall f)\) range over all (extensionally possible) functions from \(\rM^n\) to \(\rM\).

64. Similar requirements need be expressed concerning eventual second-order quantifiers \((\exists f)\).

65.
See Hintikka
(1955; 1991: 47–48; 1995: 12–13; 2006a: 476–477), and
especially Hintikka (1996: 194–195). For details about the
reduction of the validity problem of full second-order logic to that of
\(\mathbf{ESO}\), see *e.g.* Leivant (1994).

66. For an algebraic study of slash logic, see Mann (2007).

67. For the relation of Jónsson and Tarski’s Theorem 3.14 to modal logic, cf. Copeland’s entry on Arthur Prior in this encyclopedia.

68. For these observations relating the propositional part of \(\mathbf{EIFL}\), the modal logic \(\mathbf{S4}\), and intuitionistic propositional logic, see Hintikka (2004b; 2006a: 471).

69.
See Hintikka
(1991; 1995; 1996: 129,190,198,201,205; 2000: 133; 2002a: 409; 2006a:
472). It may be of interest to note that Quine (1970: 90) affirms
without hesitation that \(\mathbf{FPO}\) formulas are not
ontologically committed to higher-order entities (even if their
expressive power goes beyond \(\mathbf{FO})\). On the same basis
Quine would, no doubt, have accepted that \(\mathbf{IFL}\) is only
committed to first-order entities. (Quine’s reasons for not considering
\(\mathbf{FPO}\) as a logic were related to its
non-axiomatizability; cf. *Subsect*. 4.3.) For ontological
commitments of \(\mathbf{FPO}\) formulas, see also Patton (1991).
For the status of \(\mathbf{FPO}\) as a first-order logic, cf.
Hintikka & Kulas (1983: 50).

70. See Westerståhl’s entry on Generalized Quantifiers in this encyclopedia.

71. For, in a play of the semantic game for the formula \(Q_{\ge \kappa}z P(z)\) and the model \(M\), player 2 would choose a function \(f : \kappa \rightarrow\) M, whereafter player 1 would choose distinct ordinals \(\alpha , \beta \lt \kappa\). Player 2 would win iff \(f(\alpha) \ne f(\beta)\) and the individual \(f(\alpha)\) satisfies the predicate \(P\).

72.
Cf.
*Subsect.* 4.6. For details, see *e.g.* Leivant (1994).

73.
Both sets are
\(\Pi_2\) complete; for \(\Pi_2\) completeness, see
*e.g.* Väänänen (2007; *Ch.* 7).

74. Cf. Feferman (2006: 461,463), Hintikka (1996: 129,193,198).

75.
Cf., *e.g.*,
Hintikka (1991; 1995; 2002: 407; 2006a: 40–41).

76. Together with witnesses for disjunction symbols, likewise depending in general on the values chosen for the preceding universal quantifiers.

77. For the argument, see Hintikka (1996; 1998; 2004a; 2006a: 74).

78.
For
*limited* formal truth definitions for set theory, see Hodges’s
entry on
Tarski’s Truth Definitions
in
this encyclopedia.

79.
These
individuals are ‘sets’ only in the sense that they belong to a domain
of a model of an axiomatic *set* theory; they are not sets in
the sense in which the entities over which second-order quantifiers
range are sets (namely sets of individuals of the domain
considered).

80.
See *e.g.*
Hintikka (1996: 172–177; 1998: 319–323, 326–32; 2006a:
74). For the continuum hypothesis, and Gödel’s and Cohen’s
independence results, see Jech’s entry on
Set Theory
in this encyclopedia (Fall 2014 Edition).

81. See Hintikka (1991: 47–48; 1996: 192–193); see also Väänänen (2007: 139–141).

82. See Hintikka (1986; 1993; 1996: 208–209). The axiom of completeness appears in the second edition (1903) of Hilbert (1898). Saying that a model \(M\) is maximal requires, at least on the face of it, quantification over individuals (or sets) outside the domain of \(M.\)

83. Actually, Hintikka sees it as a conceptual confusion to speak of ‘axiomatizations’ in connection with logic as well as mathematical theories. In the former case, when possible, an axiomatization is simply a recursive enumeration of validities of the logic considered. By contrast, one can view an axiomatization of a mathematical theory as a way of compressing all the truths (not logical truths or validities) about the subject matter of the theory into a finite or recursively enumerable set of axioms (Hintikka 1996: 1–4).

84. Quantifiers occurring in conjoint constituents, quantifiers occurring in different nested \(of\) phrases, and relative clauses with several antecedents; see Hintikka (1973a, 1976a, 1979).

85.
For a
discussion, see *e.g.* Peters & Westerståhl (2006: 66–72)
and the literature referred to there.

86. This is because the set of valid \(\mathbf{FPO}\) sentences is not recursively enumerable. As Hintikka himself recognizes, to produce a rigorous argument, it would be necessary to show for an arbitrary \(\mathbf{FPO}\) sentence \(Q\phi\), not only that there is an English sentence that is naturally represented using the prefix \(Q\), but also that the grammatical constructions used allow an English counterpart of \(\phi\): whether the formula \(Q\phi\) can be translated to \(\mathbf{FO}\) crucially depends on the matrix \(\phi\).

87.
The
example is from Hintikka (1982); in this paper Hintikka does not use
the slash sign. By reference to Hintikka’s theory of the semantics of
questions (Hintikka 1976b), Carlson and ter Meulen (1979) called
attention to wh-questions formed out of suitable sentences with a
branching quantifier reading, and argued that the desideratum of such a
question will involve informational independence of the usual
quantifiers from the intensional *know*-construction.

88. In epistemic logic, the knowledge operator \(K_a\) is construed as a universal modal operator ranging over scenarios compatible with the knowledge of the agent \(a\) considered. For further information, see Hendricks & Symons’s entry on Epistemic Logic in this encyclopedia.

89. The impossibility to
express the condition \(K_I
(\forall x)(\exists y/K_I)\)
admires\((x, y)\) in \(\mathbf{FPO}\) is pointed out
in both Carlson & ter Meulen (1979) and Hintikka (1982). Here the
existential quantifier depends on the universal quantifier but not on
the knowledge operator, while the knowledge operator must precede the
universal quantifier in order for the formula to imply the
presupposed *de dicto* sentence ‘I know that everybody
admires someone.’ According to the formula
\((\forall x) K_I
(\exists y/K_I)\)
admires\((x, y)\), the agent’s knowledge would pertain
to all *actual* individuals and it would merely imply that the
agent knows of all actually existing individuals that each of them
admires someone. If it is compatible with the agent’s knowledge that
there are further individuals beside those which happen to exist
actually, this would not guarantee the truth of the *de dicto*
sentence.

90.
Cf.
Hintikka (1982, 1987, 1990), Engdahl (1986). For the uses of Skolem
functions and related ideas in linguistics – notably the
so-called *choice functions* – see *e.g.*
Reinhart (1997), von Heusinger (2004), Steedman (2012).
In logical terms, a choice function is a function taking a formula of
one free variable as its argument and returning as its value an
individual that satisfies this formula – if at least one such
individual exists.

91.
In
Hintikka & Sandu (1989: 575–576) it is said that
informational independence is a relation between *applications of
game rules*, but also that it is a relation that a *move
prompted by an expression* in a semantic game bears to a number of
earlier moves prompted by further expressions (cf. also Hintikka &
Sandu 1997: 367). The latter construal complies with the way
informational independence is understood in game theory, while the
former led to some confused examples in Hintikka and Sandu’s paper
(examples about neg-raising, pp. 577–580, see also Hintikka 1990,
Sandu 1993).