Medieval Theories of Future Contingents

First published Thu Jun 15, 2006; substantive revision Tue Mar 31, 2020

The philosophical debate concerning the truth-value of singular statements about future contingents derives from Chapter 9 of Aristotle’s treatise De interpretatione (Peri hermeneias). In Chapters 7–8, Aristotle deals with the contradictory pairs of assertoric statements which divide truth and falsity so that one is true and the other is false. In Chapter 9 he raises the question of whether this holds for all assertoric statements or whether there might be an exception concerning statements about singular future events or states of affairs which are neither necessary nor impossible and hence may take place, or may not. Aristotle’s famous example is tomorrow’s sea battle. Is the prediction that there will be a sea battle tomorrow necessarily true, if it is true, and does its truth entail that the sea battle is inevitable? After a discussion of deterministic arguments and the absurdity of fatalism (18a34–19a22), Aristotle gives his ambiguous reply in 19a23–39. Boethius’s (c. 480–524) Latin translation of De interpretatione gave rise to a long commentary tradition through the Middle Ages, beginning from the eleventh century. Boethius’s own two commentaries were very influential as well and provided information about other ancient commentaries (Magee 2010). Chapter 9 was also dealt with in theological commentaries on Peter Lombard’s Sentences (I.38) and in separate questions (Isaac 1953; Lohr 1967–1974; Craig 1988; Marenbon 2000; Braakhuis & Kneepkens 2003a; Knuuttila 2010). Al-Fārābī’s (c. 870–950) commentary on De interpretatione was influential in medieval Arabic philosophy; Averroes (1126–1198) wrote another Arabic commentary. (For future contingents in medieval Arabic thought, see Marmura 1985; Adamson 2006.)

1. From Aristotle to Boethius

The discussion about future contingents in modern philosophical logic was revived by J. Łukasiewicz’s works on three-valued logic (1957, 1967). He thought that in order to avoid fatalistic consequences, one should admit that the principle of bivalence (for any proposition p, either p is true or p is false) does not hold good for future contingent propositions. Arguing that this was realized by Aristotle in Chapter 9 of De interpretatione, Łukasiewicz attempted to formalize Aristotle’s position by introducing a third truth-value (neither true nor false) for future contingent propositions and giving three-valued truth-tables for truth-functional basic connectives. Many authors have followed Łukasiewicz in taking Aristotle to restrict the principle of bivalence, though they have not ascribed to Aristotle the details of Łukasiewicz’s system, which is problematic in many respects. In arguing for the deterministic consequences of unrestricted bivalence, Łukasiewicz himself assumed, and took Aristotle to assume, that the truth of a proposition entails the necessity of its truth. Logical determinism, therefore, is to be avoided by qualifying the truth-values of future contingent propositions. The critics of this view do not see any entailment relation between truth and necessity, some of them maintaining that the illusion of logical determinism has its roots in a tacit oscillation between a temporal and atemporal predication of truth. The temporalized reading may be associated with diachronic determination, certainty, necessity and other time-dependent qualifications. Mixing these with non-deterministic atemporal predications yields the wrong idea of fatalism (von Wright 1984: 52–67). It is argued that even the temporalized predication of truth carries no deterministic implications. (Sorabji 1980: 96–103; Sorabji’s example is that “even if it has already been true that I am going to swim, I still retain the power to make it to have been false”.)

The majority of Aristotelian scholars believe that the argument in De interpretatione 9 aims at avoiding fatalism by restricting bivalence for future contingent predictions (Frede 1970, 1985; Sorabji 1980; Craig 1988; Gaskin 1995; Crivelli 2004; Weidemann 2012). The second interpretation insists that Aristotle’s point is not to deny the truth-value of these statements, but their being true in the same way as other statements are true. The difference is that while the truth of other statements is necessary, the truth of future contingent predictions is not yet similarly determined. This interpretation is associated with Aristotle’s remark that not everything which is actual and therefore necessary is necessary without qualification (19a23). This is taken to mean that the necessity of an event at a certain time does not imply that it was inevitable. Aristotle speaks about singular future possibilities which may be realized or remain unrealized and which may or may not cease to be antecedent possibilities (see De interpretatione 19a13–17, Nicomachean Ethics III.5, 1114a17–19, Metaphysics VI.3). In the same way predictions may begin to be necessarily true or necessarily false. (For various versions of this approach, see Anscombe 1956; Rescher 1963; Hintikka 1973; Fine 1984; Judson 1988.)

The former interpretation, which denies bivalence for future contingent statements, is called the ‘traditional’ or ‘standard’ interpretation. Some Stoics read Aristotle in this way, as Boethius reports in his second commentary on Aristotle’s De interpretatione:

Now some people – the Stoics among them – thought that Aristotle says that future contingents are neither true nor false. For they interpreted his saying that nothing [of that sort] is disposed more to being than to not being as meaning that it makes no difference whether they are thought false or true; for they considered them to be neither true nor false [in Aristotle’s view], but falsely. (In Perihermeneias II, 208.1–4, trans. by N. Kretzmann.)

On the basis of a note in Simplicius’s commentary on Aristotle’s Categories (407.6–13), it is argued that some Aristotelians also qualified the principle of bivalence. (For this and other ancient deviations from the principle, see Sorabji 1980: 92–93.) On the other hand, future contingent propositions were treated as true or false in Stoic logic. The Stoics took the universally valid principle of bivalence to imply the predetermination of all future events. (See Cicero, De fato, 20–21; Bobzien 1998: 59–86.)

Boethius regarded the Stoic interpretation of Aristotle’s view as mistaken, his interpretation being based on the terms ‘definitely’ true or false and ‘indefinitely’ true or false. These same terms were also used in Ammonius’s commentary (c. 435/445–517/526). Since this work was not known to Boethius, both authors seem to have known some earlier Greek discussions in which these qualifications were introduced. (Ammonius’s Greek commentary on De interpretatione 9 is translated by D. Blank and Boethius’s Latin commentaries by N. Kretzmann in the same volume, with interpretative essays by R. Sorabji, N. Kretzmann and M. Mignucci in 1998.) The contemporary reconstructions of what Ammonius and Boethius meant can be divided into two groups. According to one interpretation, Ammonius and Boethius ascribe to Aristotle the view that the predictions of future contingent events and their denials differ from other contradictory pairs, because truth and falsity are not definitely distributed between them and the propositions are consequently neither definitely true nor definitely false. In answering the Stoic criticism, Boethius might have thought that future contingent propositions have the disjunctive property of being true-or-false, which would mean something other than simply lacking a truth value. (For various interpretations of how Boethius restricted bivalence, see Frede 1985; Craig 1988; Gaskin 1995; Kretzmann 1998.) Another interpretation holds that Boethian future contingents are not definitely true or false because their truth-makers are not yet determined, but are true or false in an indeterminate way. No qualification of the principle of bivalence is involved. True statements are either definitely true or simply (indefinitely) true or false (Mignucci 1988, 1998; Seel 2000; Beets 2003 for Boethius’s first commentary). According to both interpretations, Ammonius and Boethius assumed that the definite truth of predictions directly implies determinism and that Aristotle denied the definite truth of all future contingent propositions; it is less clear how they understood the indefinite truth of these (Sorabji 1998a). Boethius’s formulations often suggest that future contingent propositions are true-or-false. An additional reason for not treating them as simply true or false is his view of the necessity of the present. In commenting on Aristotle’s remark that “ what is necessarily is when it is” (De interpretatione 19a23), Boethius explains that even though present things are temporally or conditionally necessary, they may be generically or antecedently contingent (In Perihermeneias I, 121.20–122.4; II, 241.7–243.28). He apparently thinks that the truth of future contingent statements implies that things cannot be otherwise, for the assumed actuality of the relevant future truth-makers means that alternative diachronic prospectives are rendered temporally impossible.

In his longer commentary on De interpretatione, Boethius says of God that “he knows future events as happening contingently and not necessarily so that he does not ignore the possibility that something else might take place” (In Perihermeneias II, 226.9–12). Boethius also stresses that since the truth of future contingents is not accessible to humans, the predictions of the form “A sea battle will take place tomorrow” are false in the sense that they assert the truth of something that cannot be known (In Perihermeneias II, 211.26–213.18). In his later treatise Consolatio philosophiae Boethius states that “I do not think that anybody would say that those things which are happening now were not going to happen before they happened” (V. 4.19) In this treatise, Boethius argues that God is atemporal and has the totality of changing history present to him. God’s knowledge is thus not foreknowledge since it is not temporally located, but the predictions of future contingents are true or false from the point of view of God’s eternal knowledge of the things referred to (V.6, 25–32; see also Augustine, City of God 11.21). According to Boethius, it is necessary that if God knows that p, then p. This ‘conditional necessity’ does not imply the ‘simple necessity’ of p (Consolatio philosophiae V, 6.27–30). Some medieval authors read this distinction in Boethius and Augustine as a modal placement solution to the problem of foreknowledge and free will (Matthews 2004). Thomas Aquinas, for example, refers to Boethius’s distinction using the terms necessitas consequentiae and necessitas consequentis (Summa contra gentiles I.67; De veritate I.23, ad 13). For Boethius, see Evans 2004; Marenbon 2005; Sharples 2009; Marenbon 2013.

Boethius’s remarks on modalities have led some authors to analyze them by using models derived from modern temporal or tense logic with branching time theory developed by Prior, Burgess, Thomason and others. In applying these to Boethius, Bornholdt states that the models shed light on Boethius’s approach even though they were not intended by Boethius himself (2017: 49; see also Martin 2004: 53–63). Bornholdt extends his formal analysis to later medieval discussions as well, calling it the Boethian model. For similar non-historical reconstructions of time logic in some late medieval theories of future contingents, see the SEP entry on future contingents.

2. Medieval Developments from Abelard to Aquinas

In discussing statements such as “What is known by God necessarily takes place”, Anselm of Canterbury (1033–1109) distinguished between the antecedent and consequent necessity of things which are known. The latter is the necessity of a thing’s actuality which is caused by the actuality of the thing itself. The former is the necessity by which a thing exists because of an external cause (Cur Deus homo 2.17, 125.6–126.2). Neither antecedent knowledge nor antecedent truth has a compelling effect on things. In explaining Mary’s believing the truth of a prophetic statement concerning the death of Christ, Anselm writes:

Therefore, since her faith was true faith, it was necessary that things would be as she believed. But if you are once again disturbed by my saying “It was necessary…”, remember that the truth of the virgin’s faith was not the cause of his dying freely but that her faith was true faith because this was going to happen. (Cur Deus homo 2.17, 124.27–125.3)

Anselm thought that future contingent statements based on divine revelation were true without deterministic implications. A similar view was held by most medieval theologians when they addressed divine omniscience and prophesy. For Anselm’s view, see Knuuttila 2004.

William of Champeaux (c. 1070–1122) dealt with an argument against the compatibility between contingency and divine omniscience which was discussed in Augustine’s City of God (V.9). In response to Cicero’s De fato and De divinatione, Augustine refuted the claim that if events can happen in any way other than God has foreseen, then God can be in error. William stated that the antecedent of the argument is true but the consequent is false and therefore the consequence is not valid (Lottin 1959: 195; Marenbon 1997: 226–227). Peter Abelard (1079–1142/4), in discussing the same example, applied the systematic division between modal statements de sensu or in the compounded sense and modal statements de re or in the divided sense. (For Abelard’s modal terminology, see Glossae super Peri hermeneias XII.3–46. Later authors used the expression de dicto instead of de sensu.) Abelard’s analysis of Cicero’s argument was often repeated in medieval theology, since it was put forward in slightly modified form in Peter Lombard’s Sententiae (c. 1157), which became the standard medieval introduction to theology. Abelard states that when the proposition “A thing can be otherwise than God knows it to be” is read as a modal proposition de sensu (It is possible that a thing is otherwise than God knows it to be), the antecedent is false and the possibility of God’s error as a consequent would not be justified even if the consequence were valid. When the antecedent is read de re (A thing that is now somehow could be otherwise than God knows it to be), the proposition is true, but the consequent about God’s error is false, for if things were otherwise, God would know as they would be. This shows that the consequence is not well formulated. Following Abelard, Peter Lombard formulated the same view in stating that “Things cannot be other than as God foreknows them” is true in the compounded sense and false in the divided sense. The truth of the compounded sense saves God’s infallibility and the falsity of the divided sense expresses God’s freedom and the metaphysical contingency of the future (Peter Lombard, Sententiae I.38.2; Peter Abelard, Glossae super Peri hermeneias IX.86–99; Dialectica, 217.27–219.24). It is assumed here that when a temporally definite statement is true, its denial may be possibly true.

Early medieval logicians could deal with singular future statements as statement types with truth-values changing in accordance with the time of assertion, as in Aristotle and Hellenistic philosophy. (For the prevalence of temporally indefinite sentences in ancient philosophy, see Hintikka 1973: Ch. 4; Bobzien 1998: 66–67, 100–101, 109–111.) In the theological context of timeless divine omniscience, it was more natural to regard these statements as temporally definite. Abelard calls statements propositions (propositio) and what is asserted by a statement its dictum. He considered that a statement is true or false when its dictum is true or false. In dealing with prophesy, Abelard suggested that the dictum about a singular event is first expressed by a future tense proposition and then by present and past tense propositions. (For the nature of the dictum, contrasted with the ‘facts’ and ‘propositions’ of twentieth-century philosophical jargon, see Marenbon 1997: 202–209). The view of a fixed propositional content was developed further by twelfth-century authors who were later called nominales. One of the theses of this group was “What is once true is always true”. (See Iwakuma and Ebbesen 1992: 196, 199–201, 205–206 for the relevant texts. For the history of the principle, see also Marenbon 1992: 58–61 and Ebbesen 1992: 73–74.) This thesis was employed in the discussions of how the beliefs of Abraham and others who lived before the coming of Christ and believed various things about him were the same as the beliefs of those who live after His coming. The reason for asking this was that the previous beliefs were formulated in future tense statements and the latter in present or past tense statements. According to the nominales, one could regard as basic a temporally definite propositional content the meaning of which is expressed by various tensed expressions depending on when they are uttered. While tensed statements about temporally definite singular events have a changing truth-value, the corresponding non-tensed dicta are unchangingly true or false (Nuchelmans 1973: 177–189; for some later examples, see also Nuchelmans 1980; Lewis 1995; Goris 2001). Peter of Poitiers (c. 1130–1205), one of the authors taking this approach, argued that while the singular statements about contingent things are immutably true or false because of God’s eternal choice, their unchanging truth-value could be otherwise. God does not know contingent things through tensed statements, since their truth-value is changeable. If God’s knowledge is described by using tensed statements, analogously to the articles of faith before and after the coming of Christ, one should read them so that they signify the same (Peter of Poitiers, Sententiae I.7, 133–143; I.12.199–223; I.14.328–253). This became a well-known position since it was also employed in Peter Lombard’s Sententiae (I.39.1; I.41.3).

The theological formulations by Peter Abelard, Peter Lombard and Peter of Poitiers discussed above exemplify twelfth-century deviations from the Aristotelian thesis “What is necessarily is when it is”. This was traditionally understood as implying the principle of the necessity of the present, which was not questioned in ancient modal theories (Knuuttila 1993: Ch. 1). Since God’s knowledge about contingent things was regarded as unchangeable, the contingency of this knowledge (in the sense that it could be different) also implied the denial of the Aristotelian equation of immutability with necessity, a denial regarded as an explicit doctrine of the nominales (Iwakuma and Ebbesen 1992: 194). The new modal paradigm, which is more or less consciously applied in these discussions of God’s will, power, and knowledge, could be characterized as the model of simultaneous or synchronic alternatives. There are three main examples of it in early medieval philosophy.

Abelard assumes that at a given instant of time, what is actual is necessary as no longer avoidable, but he argues that unrealized alternatives are possible at the same time in the sense that they could have happened at that time. Some of the alternatives of a singular being are real counterfactual alternatives. These are unrealizable because of some previous change in the conditions of the subject, and some are merely imaginable alternatives, such as Socrates’s being a bishop, which never had a real basis in things. While often employing traditional ideas about necessity and possibility, Abelard also developed ideas pertaining to simultaneous alternatives. (See Martin 2003; Knuuttila 2008: 537–538.)

Gilbert of Poitiers (1085/90–1154) stressed the idea that natural regularities which are called natural necessities are not absolute, since they are chosen by God and can be overridden by divine power. This had become a widespread theological view in Gilbert’s time. Gilbert explained it in the light of the Augustinian view of God’s acting by choice between alternative providential options and omnipotence as an executive power. There is an interesting formulation of Plato’s ‘Platonitas’ in Gilbert. This is said to include all of what Plato was, is and will be as well as what he could be but never is. Even though Gilbert does not explain why there is a modal element in the individual concept, it was probably needed in order to speak about Plato in alternative possible histories or, as in Abelard, about Socrates as a bishop. Gilbert seems to have been the first to formulate an individual concept in this way (Knuuttila 1993, 75–82; Marenbon 2007: 158–159).

A third context of the systematic interest in simultaneous alternatives was the new twelfth-century theory that declarative singular statements or their contents should be primarily treated as temporally definite and as having an unchanging truth-value. All propositional contents pertaining to contingent things have a truth-value on the basis of God’s eternal choice. These truth-values would be otherwise if the providential design of the world were different in relevant respects. Robert Grosseteste (1168/75–1253) taught that the opposites of actualized contingent things are no longer realizable possibilities, though they are possible alternatives in the sense that they could have been included in God’s eternal providential choice. Actual history is an explication of one of the divine alternatives with respect to which things are primarily called necessary, possible or impossible. Necessities and possibilities at this basic level are called modalities ‘from eternity and without beginning’. Mathematical truths exemplify these ‘simple’ necessities. In addition, there are necessities and impossibilities which have a beginning and which are eternal contingencies in the sense that they depend on God’s free choice (De libero arbitrio 168.26–170.33; 178.28–29). The contingency of the divine acts of knowledge and will is associated with an atemporal causal priority between the powers and their acts (178.24–26). Grosseteste’s views are compared with those of Duns Scotus in Lewis (1996).

This was an innovative theory for dealing with future contingent statements as omnitemporally true or omnitemporally false or, if these were tensed, as antecedently true or antecedently false. The truth-values of statements about contingent things, though temporally immutable from the beginning of the world and also immutably known by God, were metaphysically contingent. The consequence from knowledge or truth to necessity, whether causal or semantic, was denied. The contingency of the created order was based on God’s eternal and and free providential choice that involved the acts of the created will as free. Anselm formulated this traditional view, following Augustine, as follows: “It is both necessary that God foreknows what will come to be and that God foreknows that something will freely come to be” (De concordia praescientiae et praedestinationis et gratiae Dei cum libero arbitrio, 1.1; cf. Augustine, On Free Choice of the Will, 3.3.8). Anselm argued that that predictions are true or false and their truth can be understood as the correspondence to what will happen, although what will contingently happen is not known to human beings without supernatural help. This was the standard view of the possibility of prophesy. (See the above quotation from Anselm’s Cur Deus homo; Peter Abelard, Glossae super Peri hermeneias, IX.69–85; Anonymous, Summa Duacensis, 129–130.)

Early medieval authors were well acquainted with the conception of God’s eternal and timeless knowledge in Augustine and Boethius. This aspect of the question of the divine knowledge and future contingents became a central issue in Thomas Aquinas, who discussed the philosophical theory of future contingents by following Aristotle and Boethius rather than twelfth-century innovators. According to Aquinas, God atemporally grasps all combinations of things in particular times by one eternal vision. Temporal things are timelessly present to God, who has direct knowledge of them and their temporal order, though none of them is past or future with respect to His cognition (Scriptum super libros Sententiarum I.38.1.4–5; Summa contra gentiles I.66; Summa theologiae I.14.9, 14). Things seen as actual are necessary by supposition (i. e., with respect to God’s knowledge and providence), but many of them are contingent with respect to their proximate causes (Scriptum super libros Sententiarum I.38.1.5, Summa contra gentiles I.67, Summa theologiae I, 14.13, De veritate 2.12). The ultimate source of the actuality of the created order is the divine free will (In libros Perihermeneias I.14, 197). Aquinas assumes that a metaphysical view of the truth or falsity of all temporally definite propositions implies that everything happens of necessity (In libros Perihermeneias I.13, 173). In order to avoid this wrong idea, one should deal with future contingent propositions like Boethius as disjunctively true or false. Their definite truth-values known by supernatural omniscience are beyond human cognitive capacities, except the various degrees of probabilities corresponding to certain types of causes (In libros Perihermeneias I.13, 172, 174). However, in the doctrine of divine providence, all historical propositions are definitely true. This is called Aquinas’s providential determinism (Porro 2013: 121–127; Posti 2017: 82). While there are prophetic predictions of future contingents through a revelatory participation in divine knowledge, their truth remains a supernatural matter (Summa theologiae II–2, 171.3, 6). Speaking about God’s atemporal knowledge as divine prescience is a temporal projection of the divine mode of knowing. For various interpretations of Aquinas’s view, see Wippel 1985; Craig 1988: 99–126; Goris 1996; Marenbon 2005; Knuuttila 2010.

Medieval critics found the allegedly Thomist idea of the presence of each instant of time to God’s non-temporal eternal vision problematic because of the transitivity and symmetry of the relation of simulaneity. (See John Duns Scotus, Lectura I.39.1–5, 23, 28, 87, and further references in Hoenen 1993: 169–70.) One could also ask how Aquinas’s view of God’s essential simplicity and immutability is compatible with the view that God’s eternal choice could be otherwise and the voluntary acts of created beings could be other than what is known by God (see Stump 2003: 100–127).

3. Interpreting Aristotle

Mignucci’s account of how Ammonius and Boethius understood the distinction between definite and indefinite truth is roughly speaking the same as the explanation of these terms in Peter Abelard’s interpretation of De interpretatione 9. Abelard believed that Aristotle assumed that future contingent statements are true or false, though not determinately true or false before the actuality of the things to which they refer (Dialectica 213.17–20). Abelard used the notions of ‘determinate/indeterminate’ instead of the Boethian ‘definite/indefinite’, as most medieval authors did. In this interpretation, he retained the principle of bivalence for all assertoric statements, but rejected the universal application of the stronger principle that every assertoric statement is determinately true or determinately false. According to Abelard, the notions of ‘determinate’ or ‘indeterminate’ apply primarily to the truth-makers of assertions and secondarily to assertions themselves:

But as the obtaining of future contingent states of affairs is indeterminate, similarly the propositions which enunciate these are said to be indeterminately true or false, for those which are true are indeterminately true and those which are false are indeterminately false, in acccordance with the indeterminate obtaining of what is predicted. Dialectica 211.30–32)

Abelard was interested in the question of whether the present truth of statements about future contingent events are themselves determinate; i. e., whether “The sentence ‘Socrates will eat tomorrow’ is true”, if true, is determinately true. Denying this, he restricted the principle that all past and present true propositions are determinately true. Abelard also distinguished between determinateness and certainty. Future contingent propositions may be certain if they are revealed by angels, for example, but they are not knowable of themselves and not determinately true. (See Glossae super Peri hermeneias IX.19–42; Dialectica 211.32–212.23; Lewis 1987.)

The ‘traditional’ view of truth and bivalence in Aristotle is put forward in an anonymous early twelfth-century commentary on De interpretatione, edited by M. Dal Pra, which is often, and probably mistakenly, attributed to Abelard. Applying Boethius’s distinction between definitely and indefinitely true statements, the author argues that future contingent statements are merely disjunctively true or false (tantum sub disjunctione); 100.13–19; 112.8–113.3). They are true-or-false.

While Abelard thought that the universal validity of the principle of bivalence was an Aristotelian view, thirteenth-century commentators argued for the traditional interpretation. Albert the Great and Thomas Aquinas took Aristotle to be arguing in De interpretatione 9 that if every contradictory pair divides truth and falsity in a determinate way and the members are consequently determinately true or false, all things must determinately be or not be. They thought that Aristotle then refuted the consequent by referring to various contingent things. It follows that the antecedent cannot be true and future contingent propositions are not determinately true or determinately false. They are true-or-false under disjunction (Albert the Great, Liber Perihermeneias, I.5.4–6, 418–422; Thomas Aquinas, In libros Perihermeneias, I.13, 170–172; I.15, 202–203). The same interpretation of Aristotle is found in Arabic commentators Abū Nasr al-Fārābī and Averroes. (See Al-Farabi’s Commentary and Short Treatise on Aristotle’s De interpretatione, trans. F. Zimmermann, lxviii, 75–76, 78–79, 91–92, 244–245, and Averroes’s Middle Commentary on Aristotle’s De interpretatione, 82va.) Al-Fārābī’s own view was that future contingents are either true or false (94–96; Marmura 1985; Adamson 2006). The traditional interpretation of Aristotle’s view was put forward by many later Latin commentators such as John Duns Scotus, Quaestiones in libros Perihermenias Aristotelis, I.7–8 (179–181), trans. Buckner and Zupko; Walter Burley, Commentarius in librum Perihermeneias Aristotelis, 92, 95–96; William Ockham, Expositio in Librum Perihermenias Aristotelis I.6.15; Peter Auriol, Scriptum in I Sententiarum I.38.3, 817–828; Gregory of Rimini, Lectura super I Sententiarum I.38.1.1 (238–243); Peter of Ailly, Quaestiones super libros Sententiarum I.11.1A). In his Supercommentary on Averroes’s Commentary on Aristotle’s De interpretatione, the Jewish philosopher Levi ben Gerson (Gersonides, 1288–1344) states that positing a truth value for future contingents leads to absurdity (83r; Rudavsky 1985: 166). However, John Buridan read Aristotle in the same way as Abelard. All assertoric statements are true or false though those about future contingents are not determinately true or false (Questiones longe super librum Perihermeneias I.10). Since theologians usually thought that divine omniscience and prophecy presupposed unrestricted bivalence, the discussion of future contingents was divided into historical constructions of Aristotle’s view, mostly in accordance with the traditional interpretation, and the systematic discussions in theology that mostly refuted this for doctrinal reasons. Later examples of the traditional interpretation of Aristotle’s view include George of Brussels, Logica magistri Georgii inserto textu Bricoti, 51rv; Iodocus Trutfetter, Summulae totius logicae II.1 (LL3v–4v); Veteris artis…Perihermeneiasque expositio (g1r); see also Baudry 1989 (ed.), La querelle des futurs contingents (Louvain 1465–1475). Textes inédits, 206. (For medieval interpretations, see Weidemann 1994; Gaskin 1995; Knuuttila 2010.)

4. Later Medieval Views

An influential late medieval approach to future contingents was included in John Duns Scotus’s theory of metaphysics as a transcendental science in which the meaning of the univocal notion of being (ens) was defined as ‘that to which to be is not repugnant’. Beings in this metaphysical sense are actual things as well as non-actual possible things, the imagined actuality of which does not include a contradiction. In the Augustinian tradition metaphysical possibilities were ultimately based on the divine essence and represented the ways in which it could be imitated by created things. According to Scotus, when God as an omniscient being knows all possibilities, he seemingly does not know them by turning first to his essence. Possibilities can be known in themselves; in fact, they would be what they are even if there were no God. Scotus calls the propositional formulations of pure possibilities logical possibilities (possibile logicum). These express things and states of affairs to which it is not repugnant to be. Possibilities as such have no kind of existence of their own, but are real in the sense that they form the precondition for everything that is or can be. (For Scotus’s modal theory, see Vos et al. 1994; Knuuttila 1996; Normore 1996, 2003; Honnefelder 2005.) Scotus takes it as an obvious fact that there are contingent states of affairs which could have not been at that very moment of time at which they are (Ordinatio I.2.1.1–2, 86). This idea of simultaneous alternatives differed from the traditional view of the necessity of the present and played and important role in Scotus’s metaphysics.

All possibilities of being receive intelligible or objective being as the objects of God’s knowledge. Some of these are included in God’s providential plan of creation and will receive actual being. The description of a possible state of affairs at a certain moment consists of compossible possibilities. Since finite beings are contingently actual, alternative possibilities are possible with respect to the time of their actuality, but they are not compossible with what is actual. According to Scotus, impossibilities are incompossibilities between possible ingredients, such as Socrates’s sitting at a certain time and Socrates’s not sitting at that same time (Lectura I.39.1–5, 62–63; Ordinatio I.35, 32, 49–51; I.36, 60–1; I.43, 5–7, 14).

Scotus’s modal metaphysics incorporates many ideas similar to those in the early medieval model developed by Abelard and the nominales, such as the denial of the necessity of the present, the distinction between immutability and necessity and the universal validity of bivalence. Giving up the Thomistic view of the atemporal presence of the flux of time to God, Scotus explains God’s knowledge of the truth-value of future contingent propositions as his knowing which of the possible scenarios will be actual and which will not (Lectura I.39.1–5, 44). The definite truth-values of the propositions about possible future events do not make them necessary, many of these being acts of the will which as a free cause chooses between alternatives without being determined. (See Vos et al. 1994; Söder 1999; for some discussions of Scotus’s view of the free acts of the will, see Dumont 2001; Normore 2003: 141–145; Langston 2010.)

Scotus famously attempted to explain the contingency of God’s eternal choice by distinguishing between the instants of nature in God’s mind that represent conceptual succession without separation or interval, for example, the instant of encountering opposite alternatives and the instant of choosing one of these. Future contingent propositions founded on God’s eternal choice are determinately true or false in such a way that they could be otherwise, independently of whether they are known or not to humans (Ordinatio I.38.2, 426) These ideas are not found in Scotus’s early questions on Aristotle’s De interpretatione that mostly follow Boethius’s views on future contingents, adding some more elaborated analyses of the structure of future-tense propositions: they may signify that it is true now that something will be or signify that something will be (Opus 2.1.7–9). See the translations and commentary in Buckner and Zupko 2014.

Ockham followed Scotus in believing that God’s choice could be other than it is and that future contingent propositions are true or false just as Scotus explicated, but he was dissatisfied with Scotus’s instants explanation, admitting that he did not have any of his own (Ordinatio d. 38, 578, 581, 584–5; Adams 1987: 1130–1136. Ockham also criticized the view that God knows future free acts through his own acts of the will as their partial cause, which he, like many of his contemporaries and later commentators, treated as Scotus’s position (Ordinatio d. 38, 582–583). This was Henry of Ghent’s view to which Scotus first subscribed but then qualified his acceptance. (See Hoenen 1993: 177–179; Söder 1999: 177–183; Schabel 2000: 43–46.) Scotus thought that there are many contingent propositions known by God that are not simply chosen but rather permitted such as those about creaturely sins and other acts of free will (see Frost 2010).

In Scotus’ theory, the synchronic alternatives of a future free act remain possibilities though not compossibilities at the instant of that act. He thought that these “logical potencies” expressed by propositions with non-repugnant terms are not sufficient for freedom that requires “real potencies” for alternatives at an instant of time with respect to the same instant (see Dumont 1995). Ockham did not accept this part of Scotus’s denial of the necessity of the present, thinking that real capacities for oppositions are diachronic (Ordinatio d. 38, 581). Opposite real capacities without temporal succession at an instant were found problematic by Thomas Wylton, an early critic of Scotus’s ideas who, while largely following Boethius, put forward some propositional distinctions similar to those in Scotus’s questions on De interpretatione. See the edition and comments in Schabel 2011b; Bornholdt 2017: 116–120.

Ockham believed, as Scotus did, that future contingent propositions are true or false, that created wills are non-determined free causes, and that God knows contingent events without their being simultaneously present to God. (For Ockham’s view, see Adams and Kretzmann 1983; Normore 1982.) While Scotus preferred to distinguish God’s eternal knowledge and choice from the temporal order sharply (Lectura I.39.1–2, n. 28, 85; Ordinatio I.40, n. 8), Ockham thought that they can be treated as temporally past. This led him to ask how God’s foreknowledge as something past and hence seemingly necessary is compatible with the contingency of future things. Ockham’s answer was that even though God’s foreknowledge is past, its content is future, and the past truth of future contingent propositions in God’s immutable but contingent knowledge does not fall under the necessity of the past (Ordinatio d. 38, 387–8; Tractatus de praedestinatione 515–516). Many influential late thinkers embraced Ockham’s view. (See Robert Holkot, Sent. II.2 in Seeing the Future Clearly, 127, 145–146; Gregory of Rimini, Lectura super I Sententiarum I.38.2.3 (302–303); Pierre d’Ailly, Quaestiones super libros Sententiarum I.11.3S.) This is also the hallmark of what is called the Ockhamist view of divine foreknowledge in contemporary philosophical theology (Zagzebski 1991: 66–97).

Walter Chatton was a contemporary critic of Ockhams’s views about future contingents and divine knowledge. He also addressed the theories of Scotus, Wylton, and particularly Peter Auriol, his main source of inspiration, but mostly avoided formulating his own position. For an English translation with a commentary of his main treatise on future contingents, see Bornholdt 2017; see also the SEP entry on Walter Chatton. Peter Auriol put forward an original revision of the usual theological position that while future contingent propositions were neither true nor false in Aristotle, this was not acceptable concerning divine knowledge. Auriol argued that since these propositions lack a truth value, even God is aware of the future in an “indistant” way that does not imply that future contingent propositions should be treated as true or false. Auriol’s indistant knowledge abstracts from temporality and simultaneity and is allegedly compatible with God’s necessary immutability and human free will (Schabel 2000: 67–123). Auriol’s position inspired much critical discussion until early sixteenth century. It came to be regarded as heretical when a Papal commission made a decision about the theses of Peter de Rivo, who defended a view similar to that of Auriol. Some of de Rivo’s statements were officially condemned in 1474 by Pope Sixtus IV (Baudry 1989 (ed.), La querelle des futurs contingents (Louvain 1465–1475). Textes inédits; Schabel 1995–96, 2000: 315–336, 2003a).

English fourteenth-century authors often commented on the terminological distinctions between determinate and indeterminate truth and falsity. Ockham characterized all prospective truths, whether necessary or contingent, as immutable and therefore determinate, but there were other suggestions as well. Walter Burley, Richard of Campsall, Arnold of Strelley, and Robert Holkot preferred to call true propositions about future contingent things as indeterminately or contingently true. Some commentators have argued that speaking about this special mode of being true or false was an attempt to modify bivalence by formulating an idea of many-valued logic, see Normore 1982, 1993; Gelber 2004: 224–250. For further texts and studies on late medieval controversies related to foreknowledge, freedom and future contingents, see Genest 1992; Schabel 2003a, 2003b, 2007, 2011a, 2011b; Schabel, Friedman, and Balcoyiannopoulou 2001; Rossini and Schabel 2005; Thakkar 2005, 2010.

A central question for those who gave up the Thomist view was how God can eternally know the acts of the will which is a free cause? An influential answer was offerred in the theory of middle knowledge by Luis de Molina (1535–1600). In addition to the knowledge of all possibilities and the possibilities which will be actualized in the providentially chosen history, God has a third kind of knowledge (scientia media), which comprises the hypothetical truths about possible beings. In creating the world, God knows what possible creatures would do in any possible situation (Freddoso 1988). Molina’s ‘middle knowledge’ theory about counterfactuals of freedom was actively debated in the sixteenth and seventeenth century and has remained a living issue in the philosophy of religion (Dekker 2000).


Primary sources

  • Abū Nasr al-Fārābī, Al-Farabi’s Commentary and Short Treatise on Aristotle’s De interpretatione, trans. with introduction and notes by F.W. Zimmermann (The British Academy Classical and Medieval Logic Texts 3), Oxford: Oxford University Press, 1981.
  • Albert the Great, Liber Perihermeneias, in Opera omnia, A. Borgnet (ed.), vol. I, Paris: Vivès, 1890.
  • Ammonius, In Aristotelis De interpretatione commentarius, A. Busse (ed.), (Commentaria in Aristotelem Graeca 4.5), Berlin, 1897.
  • –––, On Aristotle: On Interpretation 9, David Blank (trans.), with Boethius, On Aristotle: On Interpretation 9, first and second Commentaries, Norman Kretzmann (trans.), with essays by Richard Sorabji, Norman Kretzmann, and Mario Mignucci, London: Duckworth, 1998. doi:10.5040/9781472551733
  • Anonymous, Editio super Aristotelem De interpretatione, in Pietro Abelardo Scritti di Logica, M. Dal Pra (ed.), Florence: La Nuova Italia, 1969.
  • Anonymous, Summa Duacensis (Douai 434), P. Glorieux (ed.), Paris: Vrin, 1955.
  • Anselm of Canterbury, Opera omnia, 6 vols, F. S. Schmitt (ed.), Edinburgh: Nelson, 1946–1961.
  • Aristotle, Categoriae et Liber de Interpretatione, L. Minio-Paluello (ed.), Oxford: Clarendon Press, 1989.
  • Augustine, De civitate Dei, B. Dombart and A. Kalb (eds.), (Corpus Christianorum Series Latina 47–48), Turnhout: Brebols, 1955.
  • –––, De libero arbitrio, W.M. Green (ed.), (Corpus Christianorum Series Latina 29), Turnhout: Brepols, 1970.
  • Averroes, Commentum medium super libro Peri hermeneias Aristotelis, Translatio Wilhelmo de Luna attributa , R. Hissette (ed.), (Averroes Latinus 12), Louvain: Peeters, 1996; Aristotelis De interpretatione cum Averrois expositione et Levi Chersonidis annotationes in Aristotelis Opera cum Averrois commentariis, vol. I.1, Venice 1562, reprinted, Frankfurt am Main: Minerva 1962.
  • –––, Commentaire moyen sur le De interpretatione, trans. with introduction and notes by A. Benmakhlouf and S. Diebler, (Sic et non), Paris: Vrin, 2000.
  • –––, Middle Commentaries on Aristotle’s Categories and De interpretatione, C.E. Butterworth (trans.), South Bend: St. Augustine’s Press, 1998.
  • Baudry, L. (ed.), La querelle des futurs contingents (Louvain 1465–1475). Textes inédits, (Études de philososphie médiévale 38), Paris: Vrin, 1950; The Quarrel over Future Contingents (Louvain 1465–1475), by R. Querlac (trans.), (Synthese Historical Library 36), Dordrecht: Kluwer Academic Publishers, 1989.
  • Boethius, Commentarii in librum Aristotelis Perihermeneias I–II, C. Meiser (ed.), Leipzig: Teubner, 1877–1880.
  • –––, Philosophiae consolatio, L. Bieler (ed.), (Corpus Christianorum Series Latina 94), Turnhout: Brepols, 1957.
  • Cicero, De fato, with an English translation by H. Rackham, (Loeb Classical Library 349), London: Heinemann, and Cambridge, MA: Harvard University Press, 1968.
  • George of Brussels, Logica magistri Georgii inserto textu Bricoti, Paris, 1493.
  • Gregory of Rimini, Lectura super Primum et Secundum Sententiarum, D. Trapp and V. Marcolino (eds), vol. III, (Spätmittelalter und Reformation: Texte und Untersuchungen 8), Berlin: de Gruyter, 1984.
  • John Buridan, Questiones longe super librum Perihermeneias, R. van der Lecq (ed.), (Artistarium 4), Nijmegen: Ingenium Publishers, 1983.
  • John Duns Scotus, Quaestiones in libros Perihermenias Aristotelis, R. Andrews et al. (eds.), Opera Philosophica II, St. Bonaventure, N.Y.: The Franciscan Institute, 2004; see also Buchner and Zupko 2014.
  • –––, Opera omnia, (studio et cura Commissionis Scotisticae), Vatican City: Vatical Press, 1950.
  • Levi ben Gerson, Aristotelis De interpretatione cum Averrois expositione et Levi Chersonidis annotationes in Aristotelis Opera cum Averrois commentariis, vol. I.1, Venice 1562, reprinted, Frankfurt am Main: Minerva 1962.
  • Peter Abelard, Dialectica, L.M. de Rijk (ed.), (Wijsgerige teksten en studies 1), Assen: van Gorcum, 1956.
  • –––, Glossae super Peri hermeneias, K. Jacobi and C. Strub (eds.), (Corpus Christianorum Continuatio Mediaevalis 206), Turnhout: Brepols, 2010.
  • Peter Auriol, Scriptum in I Sententiarum, dist. 38–39, C. Schabel (ed.) in “Peter Aureol on Divine Foreknowledge and Future Contingents” in Cahiers de l’Institut du moyen-âge grec et latin, Université de Copenhague, 65 (1995): 63–212.
  • Peter of Ailly, Quaestiones super libros Sententiarum, Strasbourg, 1490.
  • Peter Lombard, Sententiae in IV libris distinctae, edited by PP. Collegium S. Bonaventurae, Grottaferrata: Collegium S. Bonaventurae ad Claras Aquas, 1971–1981.
  • Peter of Poitiers, Sententiae I, P. S. Moore and M. Dulong (eds.), (Publications in Medieval Studies 7), Notre Dame, IN: The University of Notre Dame Press, 1961.
  • Robert Grosseteste, De libero arbitrio in Die philosophischen Werke des Robert Grosseteste, L. Baur (ed.), (Beiträge zur Geschichte der Philosophie des Mittelalters 9) Münster: Aschendorff, 1912; N. Lewis, “The First Recension of Robert Grosseteste’s De libero arbitrio”, Mediaeval Studies, 53 (1991): 1–88.
  • Robert Holkot, Seeing the Future Clearly: Quodlibetal Questions on Future Contingents by Robert Holcot, edited by Paul Streveler and Katherine Tachau with William J. Courtenay and Hester Goodenough Gelber, introduction by K. Tachau, (Studies and Texts 119), Toronto: Pontifical Institut of Mediaeval Studies, 1995.
  • Simplicius, In Aristotelis Categorias commentarium, C. Kalbfleisch (ed.), (Commentaria in Aristotelem Graeca 8), Berlin, 1907.
  • Thomas Aquinas, In libros Aristotelis Peri hermeneias et Posteriorum analyticorum expositio, R.M. Spiazzi (ed.), Turin: Marietti 1964; Expositio libri Peryermenias, edited by cura et studio Fratrum Praedicatorum, Rome: Commissio Leonina, Paris: Vrin, 1989; On interpretation, J. T. Oesterle (trans.), Milwaukee: Marquette University Press, 1962.
  • –––, Quaestiones disputatae I: De veritate, R.S. Spiazzi (ed.), Turin: Marietti, 1964.
  • –––, Scriptum super libros Sententiarum, P. Mandonnet and M.F. Moos (eds.), 5 vols, Paris: Lethielleux, 1929–1956.
  • –––, Summa contra gentiles, C. Pera, P. Marc, and P. Caramello (eds.), Turin: Marietti, 1961–1967.
  • –––, Summa theologiae, P. Caramello (ed.), Turin: Marietti 1948–1950.
  • Trutfetter, Iodocus, Summulae totius logicae, Erfurt, 1501.
  • –––, Veteris artis, id est, Porphyrii Universalium et Praedicamentorum Aristotelis Perihermeneiasque expositio, s.l., s.a., c. 1500.
  • Walter Burley, Commentarius in librum Perihermeneias Aristotelis, S. Brown (ed.) in “Walter Burley’s Middle Commentary on Aristotle’s Peri hermeneias”, Franciscan Studies, 33(1973): 42–134.
  • William Ockham, Expositio in librum Perihermenias Aristotelis, A. Gambatese and S. Brown (eds.), (Opera philosophica II), St. Bonaventure: St. Bonaventure University, 1978.
  • –––, Tractatus de praedestinatione et de praescientia Dei respectu futurorum contingentium, Ph. Boehner and S. Brown (eds.), (Opera philosophica II), St. Bonaventure: St. Bonaventure University, 1978; translated in Adams and Kretzmann, 1983.
  • –––, Ordinatio. Scriptum in Librum primum Sententiarum, dist. 19–48, G.I. Etzkorn and F.E. Kelley (eds.), (Opera theologica IV), St. Bonaventure: St. Bonaventure University, 1979.

Secondary sources

  • Adams, Marilyn McCord and Norman Kretzmann, 1983, William of Ockham: Predestination, God’s Foreknowledge, and Future Contingents, second edition, Indianapolis, IN: Hackett Pub. Co.
  • Adams, Marilyn McCord, 1987, William Ockham, Notre Dame: University of Notre Dame Press.
  • Adamson, Peter, 2006, “The Arabic Sea Battle: Al-Fārābī on the Problem of Future Contingents”, Archiv für Geschichte der Philosophie, 88(2): 163–188. doi:10.1515/AGPH.2006.007
  • Anscombe, G. E. M., 1956, “Aristotle and the Sea Battle: De Interpretatione 9”, Mind, 65(257): 1–15. doi:10.1093/mind/65.1.1
  • Beets, F., 2003, “Theories of Prediction from Boethius to Thomas Aquinas”, in Braakhuis and Kneepkens 2003b: 305–319. doi:10.1484/M.ARTS-EB.4.00087
  • Bobzien, Susanne, 1998, Determinism and Freedom in Stoic Philosophy, Oxford: Clarendon Press. doi:10.1093/0199247676.001.0001
  • Bornholdt, Jon, 2017, Walter Chatton on Future Contingents: Between Formalism and Ontology, Leiden: Brill. doi:10.1163/9789004338340
  • Braakhuis, H.A.G. and C.H. Kneepkens, 2003a, “Introduction”, in Braakhuis and Kneepkens 2003b: ix–xli. doi:10.1484/M.ARTS-EB.4.00072
  • Braakhuis, H.A.G. and C.H. Kneepkens (eds.), 2003b, Aristotle’s Peri Hermeneias in the Latin Middle Ages. Essays on the Commentary Tradition, (Artistarium: Supplementa 10), Groningen: Ingenium Publishers. doi:10.1484/M.ARTS-EB.5.105730
  • Buchner, Edward and Jack Zupko, 2014, Duns Scotus on Time and Existence. The Questions on Aristotle’s De interpretatione, translated with introduction and commentary, Washington, DC: The Catholic University of America Press.
  • Craig, William Lane, 1988, The Problem of Divine Foreknowledge and Future Contingents from Aristotle to Suarez, (Brill’s Studies in Intellectual History, 7), Leiden: Brill.
  • Crivelli, Paolo, 2004, Aristotle on Truth, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press. doi:10.1017/CBO9780511482496
  • Davies, Brian and Brian Leftow (eds.), 2004, The Cambridge Companion to Anselm, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press. doi:10.1017/CCOL0521807468
  • Dekker, Eef, 2000, Middle Knowledge, (Studies in Philosophical Theology, 20), Leuven: Peeters.
  • Dumont, Stephen D., 1995, “The Origin of Scotus’s Theory of Synchronic Contingency:”, The Modern Schoolman, 72(2): 149–167. doi:10.5840/schoolman1995722/312
  • –––, 2001, “Did Scotus Change His Mind on the Will?” in Nach der Verurteilung von 1277. Philosophie und Theologie an der Universität von Paris im letzten Viertel des 13. Jahrhunderts, Jan A. Aertsen, Kent Emery, and Andreas Speer (eds.), (Miscellanea Mediaevalia 28), Berlin, New York: de Gruyter, 719–794. doi:10.1515/9783110820577.719
  • Ebbesen, Sten, 1992, “What Must One Have an Opinion About”, Vivarium, 30(1): 62–79. doi:10.1163/156853492X00052
  • Evans, Jonathan, 2004, “Boethius on Modality and Future Contingents”:, American Catholic Philosophical Quarterly, 78(2): 247–271. doi:10.5840/acpq200478214
  • Fine, Gail, 1984, “Truth and Necessity in De interpretatione 9”, History of Philosophy Quarterly, 1(1): 23–47.
  • Freddoso, Alfred J. (trans.), 1988, Luis de Molina, ‘On Divine Foreknowledge’, Part IV of the “Concordia”, with introduction and notes, Ithaca, NY: Cornell University Press.
  • Frede, Dorothea, 1970, Aristoteles und die “Seeschlacht”: Das Problem der Contingentia Futura in De Interpretatione 9, (Hypomnemata 27), Göttingen: Vandenhoeck & Ruprecht.
  • –––, 1985, “The Sea-Battle Reconsidered : A Defense of the Traditional Interpretation”, Oxford Studies in Ancient Philosophy, 3: 31–87.
  • Frost, Gloria, 2010, “John Duns Scotus on God’s Knowledge of Sins: A Test-Case for God’s Knowledge of Contingents”, Journal of the History of Philosophy, 48(1): 15–34. doi:10.1353/hph.0.0184
  • Gaskin, Richard, 1995, The Sea Battle and the Master Argument, (Quellen und Studien zur Philosophie 40), Berlin: de Gruyter.
  • Gelber, Hester, 2004, It Could Have Been Otherwise: Contingency and Necessity in Dominican Theology at Oxford 1300–1350, (Studien und Texte zur Geistesgeschichte des Mittelalters 81), Leiden: Brill.
  • Genest, Jean-François, 1992, Prédétermination et liberté créée à Oxford au XIVe siècle: Buckingham contre Bradwardine, Paris: Vrin.
  • Goris, Harm J. M. J., 1996, Free Creatures of an Eternal God. Thomas Aquinas on God’s Infallible Foreknowledge and Irresistible Will, Leuven: Peeters.
  • –––, 2001, “Tense Logic in 13th-Century Theology”, Vivarium, 39(2): 161–184. doi:10.1163/156853401760017169
  • Hintikka, Jaakko, 1973, Time and Necessity: Studies in Aristotle’s Theory of Modality, Oxford: Clarendon Press.
  • Hoenen, Maarten J.F.M., 1993, Marsilius of Inghen: Divine Knowledge in Late Medieval Thought, (Studies in the History of Christian Thought 50), Leiden: Brill.
  • Honnefelder, Ludger, 2005, Duns Scotus, Munich: Beck.
  • Honnefelder, Ludger, Rega Wood, and Mechthild Dreyer (eds.), 1996, John Duns Scotus: Metaphysics and Ethics, (Studien und Texte zur Geistesgeschichte des Mittelalters 53), Leiden: Brill.
  • Isaac, Jean, 1953, Le ‘Peri hermeneias’ en occident de Boèce à Saint Thomas. Histoire littéraire d’un traité d’Aristote, (Bibliothèque thomiste 29), Paris: Vrin.
  • Judson, Lindsay, 1988, “La Bataille Navale d’aujourd’hui: ‘De Interpretatione’ 9”, Vincent de Coorebyter (trans.), Revue de Philosophie Ancienne, 6(1): 5–37.
  • Iwakuma, Yukio and Sten Ebbesen, 1992, “Logico-Theological Schools from the Second Half of the 12th Century: A List of Sources”, Vivarium, 30(1): 173–210. doi:10.1163/156853492X00124
  • Knuuttila, Simo, 1993, Modalities in Medieval Philosophy, London, New York: Routledge. Reprinted 2020.
  • –––, 1996, “Duns Scotus and the Foundations of Logical Modalities” in Honnefelder, Wood and Dreyer 1996: 127–143.
  • –––, 2004, “Anselm on Modality”, in Davies and Leftow 2004: 111–131. doi:10.1017/CCOL0521807468.006
  • –––, 2008, “Medieval Modal Theories and Modal Logic”, in Handbook of the History of Logic 2: Mediaeval and Renaissance Logic, Dov M. Gabbay and John Woods (eds.), Amsterdam: Elsevier, 505–578.
  • –––, 2010, “Medieval Commentators on Future Contingents in De Interpretatione 9”, Vivarium, 48(1–2): 75–95. doi:10.1163/156853410X489727
  • Kretzmann, Norman, 1998, “Boethius and the Truth about Tomorrow’s Sea Battle”, in Sorabji 1998b: 24–52.
  • Langston, Douglas C., 2010, “God’s Willing Knowledge, Redux”, Recherches de Théologie et Philosophie Médiévales, 77(2): 235–282.
  • Lewis, Neil T., 1987, “Determinate Truth in Abelard”, Vivarium, 25(2): 81–109. doi:10.1163/156853487X00076
  • –––, 1995, “William of Auvergne’s Account of the Enuntiable: Its Relations to Nominalism and the Doctrine of the Eternal Truths”, Vivarium, 33(2): 113–136. doi:10.1163/1568534952579687
  • –––, 1996, “Power and Contingency in Robert Grosseteste and Duns Scotus”, in Honnefelder, Wood, and Dreyer 1996: 205–225.
  • Lohr, Charles H., 1967–74, “Medieval Latin Aristotle Commentaries”, 7 parts, Traditio,
    • 1967, “Authors: A–F”, 23: 313–413. doi:10.1017/S0362152900008795
    • 1968, “Authors G–I”, 24: 149–245. doi:10.1017/S0362152900004724
    • 1970, “Authors: Jacobus–Johannes Juff”, 26: 135–216. doi:10.1017/S0362152900004980
    • 1971, “Authors: Johannes de Kanthi–Myngodus”, 27: 251–351. doi:10.1017/S0362152900005341
    • 1972, “Authors: Narcissus–Richardus”, 28: 281–396. doi:10.1017/S0362152900011557
    • 1973, “Authors: Robertus–Wilgelmus”, 29: 93–197. doi:10.1017/S0362152900008989
    • 1974, “Supplementary Authors”, 30: 119–144. doi:10.1017/S0362152900006498
  • Lottin, Odon, 1959, Psychologie et morale aux XIIe et XIIIe siècles, vol. 5, Louvain: Abbaye de Mont César.
  • Łukasiewicz, Jan, 1957, Aristotle’s Syllogistic from the Standpoint of Modern Formal Logic, Oxford: Clarendon Press.
  • –––, 1967, “Philosophical Remarks on Many-Valued Systems of Propositional Logic”, in Polish Logic 1920–1939, Storrs McCall (ed.), Oxford: Clarendon Press, 40–65.
  • Magee, John, 2010, “On the Composition and Sources of Boethius’ Second Peri Hermeneias Commentary”, Vivarium, 48(1–2): 7–54. doi:10.1163/156853410X489709
  • Marenbon, John, 1992, “Vocalism, Nominalism and the Commentaries on the Categories from the Earlier Twelfth Century”, Vivarium, 30(1): 51–61. doi:10.1163/156853492X00043
  • –––, 1994, “Medieval Latin Glosses and Commentaries on Aristotelian Logical texts, Before c. 1150 AD” in Glosses and Commentaries on Aristotelian Logical Texts: The Syriac, Arabic and Medieval Latin Traditions, Charles S. F. Burnett (ed.), (Warburg Institute Surveys and Texts 23), London: The Warburg Institute, 77–127.
  • –––, 1997, The Philosophy of Peter Abelard, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press. doi:10.1017/CBO9780511582714
  • –––, 2000, Aristotelian Logic, Platonism, and the Context of Early Medieval Philosophy in the West, (Variorum Collected Studies Series 696), Aldershot: Ashgate.
  • –––, 2005, Le temps, l’éternité et la prescience de Boèce à Thomas d’Aquin, Paris: Vrin.
  • –––, 2007, Medieval Philosophy: An Historical and Philosophical Introduction, London: Routledge.
  • –––, 2013, “Divine Prescience and Contingency in Boethius’s Consolation of Philosophy”, Rivista di Storia della Filosofia, n.s. 68(1): 9–22.
  • Marmura, Michael E., 1985, “Divine Omniscience and Future Contingents in Alfarabi and Avicenna”, in Rudavsky 1985b: 81–94. doi:10.1007/978-94-015-7719-9_5
  • Martin, Christopher, 2003, “An Amputee is Biped. The Role of the Categories in the Development of Abelard’s Theory of Possibility” in La Tradition médiévale des Catégories (XIIe–XVe siècles), Joël Biard and Irène Rosier-Catach (eds.), (Philosophes médiévaux 45), Louvain-la-Neuve: Éditions de l’Institut Supérieur de Philosophie, Louvain-Paris: Peeters, 225–242.
  • –––, 2004, “John Mair on Future Contingency”, in John Buridan and Beyond: Topics in the Language Sciences, 1300–1700, Russell L. Friedman and Sten Ebbesen (eds.), Copenhagen: The Royal Danish Academy of Sciences and Letters, 183–201.
  • Martin, John N., 2004, Themes in Neoplatonic and Aristotelian Logic, Aldershot: Ashgate.
  • Matthews, Gareth, 2004, “Anselm, Augustine, and Platonism”, in Davies and Leftow 2004: 61–83. doi:10.1017/CCOL0521807468.004
  • Mignucci, Mario, 1988, “Truth and Modality in Late Antiquity: Boethius on Future Contingent Propositions” in Atti del convegno Internazionale di Storia della Logica. Le Teorie delle Modalità, Giovanna Angela Corsi, Corrado Mangione, and Massimo Mugnai (eds.), Bologna: CLUEB, 47–78.
  • –––, 1998, “Ammonius’ Sea Battle”, in Sorabji 1998b: 53–86.
  • Normore, Calvin G., 1982, “Future Contingents”, in The Cambridge History of Later Medieval Philosophy, Norman Kretzmann, Anthony Kenny, Jan Pinborg, and Eleonore Stump (eds.), Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 358–382. doi:10.1017/CHOL9780521226059.021
  • –––, 1985, “Divine Omniscience, Omnipotence and Future Contingents: An Overview”, in Rudavsky 1985b: 3–22. doi:10.1007/978-94-015-7719-9_1
  • –––, 1993, “Petrus Aureoli and His Contemporaries on Future Contingents and Excluded Middle”, Synthese, 96(1): 83–92. doi:10.1007/BF01063803
  • –––, 1996, “Scotus, Modality, Instants of Nature, and the Contingency of the Present”, in Honnefelder, Wood, and Dreyer 1996: 161–174.
  • –––, 2003, “Duns Scotus’s Modal Theory”, in The Cambridge Companion to Duns Scotus, Thomas Williams (ed.), Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 129–160. doi:10.1017/CCOL0521632056.005
  • Nuchelmans, Gabriel, 1973, Theories of the Proposition: Ancient and Medieval Conceptions of the Bearers of Truth and Falsity, Amsterdam: North-Holland.
  • –––, 1980, “Adam Wodeham on the Meaning of Declarative Sentences”, Historiographia Linguistica, 7(1–2): 177–187. doi:10.1075/hl.7.1-2.13nuc
  • Porro, Pasquale, 2013, “Contingenza e impedibilità delle cause. Presupposti e implicazioni di un dibattito scolastico”, Rivista di storia della filosofia, n.s. 68(1): 113–147.
  • Posti, Mikko, 2017, Divine Providence in Medieval Philosophical Theology 1250–1350, Th. D. dissertation, University of Helsinki.
  • Rescher, Nicholas, 1963, Studies in the History of Arabic Logic, Pittsburg: University of Pittsburgh Press.
  • Rossini, Marco and Christopher Schabel, 2005, “Time and Eternity among Early Scotists: Texts on Future Contingents by Alexander of Alexandria, Radulphus Brito, and Hugh of Novocastro”, Documenti e studi sulla tradizione filosofia medievale, 16: 237–338.
  • Rudavsky, Tamar, 1985a, “Divine Omniscience, Contingency and Prophecy in Gersonides”, in Rudavsky 1985b: 161–181. doi:10.1007/978-94-015-7719-9_10
  • ––– (ed.), 1985b, Divine Omniscience and Omnipotence in Medieval Philosophy, (Synthese Historical Library 25), Dordrecht: Reidel. doi:10.1007/978-94-015-7719-9
  • Schabel, Christopher, 1995–6, “Peter de Rivo and the Quarrel over Future Contingents at Louvain: New Evidence and New Perspectives”, Documenti e studi sulla tradizione filosofica medievale, 6(1995): 363–473, 7(1996): 369–435.
  • –––, 2000, Theology at Paris, 1316–1345: Peter Aureol and the Problem of Divine Foreknowledge and Future Contingents, Aldershot: Ashgate.
  • –––, 2003a, “Divine Foreknowledge and Human Freedom: Auriol, Pomponazzi, and Luther on ‘Scholastic Subtleties’”, in The Medieval Heritage in Early Modern Metaphysics and Modal Theory, 1400–1700, Russell L. Friedman and Lauge O. Nielsen (eds.), (The New Synthese Historical Library 53), Dordrecht: Springer Netherlands, 165–189. doi:10.1007/978-94-017-0179-2_9
  • –––, 2003b, “Peter Thomae’s Question on Divine Foreknowledge from His Sentences Commentary”, Franciscan Studies, 61: 1–35. doi:10.1353/frc.2003.0005 and doi:10.1353/frc.2003.0007
  • –––, 2007, “Early Franciscan Attacks on John Duns Scotus’s Doctrine of Divine Foreknowledge”, in What is “Theology”in the Middle Ages? Religious Cultures of Europe (11th-15th Centuries) as Reflected in Their Self-Understanding, Mikołaj Olszewski (ed.), (Archa verbi, subsidia 1), Münster: Aschendorff, 301–328.
  • –––, 2011a, “Parisian Secular Masters on Divine Foreknowledge in the Early Fourteenth Century, Part I: John of Pouilly’s Quaestio Ordinaria I”, Recherches de Théologie et Philosophie médiévales, 78(1): 161–219.
  • –––, 2011b, “Parisian Secular Masters on Divine Foreknowledge in the Early Fourteenth Century, Part II: Thomas Wylton’s Quaestio Ordinaria ‘Utrum praedestinatus possit damnari’”, Recherches de Théologie et Philosophie médiévales, 78(2): 417–479.
  • Schabel, Chris, Russell L. Friedman, and Irene Balcoyiannopoulou, 2001, “Peter of Palude and the Parisian Reaction to Durand of St Pourçain on Future Contingents”, Archivum Fratrum Praedicatorum, 71: 183–300.
  • Seel, Gerhard, 2000, “‘In a Definite Way True’: Truth-Values and their Modalization in Ammonius”, in Gerhard Seel (ed.), Ammonius and the Seabattle: Texts, Commentary, and Essays, Berlin: de Gruyter, 234–246.
  • Sharples, Robert, 2009, “Fate, Prescience and Free Will”, in The Cambridge Companion to Boethius, John Marenbon (ed.), Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 207–227. doi:10.1017/CCOL9780521872669.010
  • Söder, Joachim, 1999, Kontingenz und Wissen. Die Lehre von den ‘futura contingentia’ bei Johannes Duns Scotus, (Beiträge zur Geschichte der Philosophie und Theologie des Mittelalters, Neue Folge 49), Münster: Aschendorff.
  • Sorabji, Richard, 1980, Necessity, Cause and Blame: Perspectives on Aristotle’s Theory, Ithaca, NY: Cornell University Press.
  • –––, 1998a, “The Tree Deterministic Arguments Opposed by Ammonius”, in Sorabji 1998b: 3–15.
  • ––– (ed.), 1998b, Ammonius: On Aristotle, On Interpretation 9; with Boethius: On Aristotle, On Interpretation 9, Norman Kretzmann and David Blank (trans.), London: Duckworth. doi:10.5040/9781472551733
  • Stump, Eleonore, 2003, Aquinas, (Arguments of the Philosophers), London: Routledge.
  • Thakkar, Mark, 2005, Gregory of Rimini and the Logic of the Future, Masters thesis, Warburg Institute. [Thakkar 2005 available online]
  • –––, 2010, Peter Auriol and the Logic of the Future, Ph.D. dissertation, University of Oxford.
  • von Wright, Georg Henrik, 1984, Truth, Knowledge and Modality, Oxford: Blackwell.
  • Vos, A., H. Veldhuis, A.H. Looman-Graanskamp, E. Dekker, and N.W. den Bok, 1994, John Duns Scotus, Contingency and Freedom, Lectura I.39, trans. with introduction and commentary, (The New Synthese Historical Library 42), Dordrecht: Kluwer Academic Publishers.
  • Weidemann, Hermann (trans./comm.), 1994, Aristoteles, Peri hermeneias, (Werke in deutscher Uebersetzung 1.2), Berlin: Akademie-Verlag.
  • –––, 2012, “Aristotle’s De interpretatione”, in The Oxford Handbook of Aristotle, Christopher Shields (ed.), Oxford: Oxford University Press, 81–112.
  • Wippel, John F., 1985, “Divine Knowledge, Divine Power and Human Freedom in Thomas Aquinas and Henry of Ghent”, in Rudavsky 1985b: 213–241. doi:10.1007/978-94-015-7719-9_12
  • Zagzebski, Linda Trinkaus, 1991, The Dilemma of Freedom and Foreknowledge, Oxford: Oxford University Press. doi:10.1093/acprof:oso/9780195107630.001.0001

Other Internet Resources

[Please contact the author with suggestions.]

Copyright © 2020 by
Simo Knuuttila

Open access to the SEP is made possible by a world-wide funding initiative.
The Encyclopedia Now Needs Your Support
Please Read How You Can Help Keep the Encyclopedia Free