#### Supplement to Proof-Theoretic Semantics

## Definitional Reflection and Paradoxes

The theory of definitional reflection is most conveniently framed in
a sequent-style system. If the definition of *A* has the
form

and the Δ_{i} have the form
‘*B*_{i1}*,**…**,B*_{iki}’,
then the right-introduction rules for *A* (definitional closure)
are

or, in short,

and the left-introduction rule for *A* (definitional
reflection) is

If ⊥ is an atom for which no definitional clause in given,
then ⊥⊢ *C* is derivable for any *C*—we
just have to apply definitional reflection with the empty set
(*n* = 0) of premisses. “⇒” denotes a
structural implication for which we assume that the rules

are available. They can be obtained immediately from Gentzen's sequent-rules for implication.

Now suppose we have the following definition which consists
of a single clause defining *R* in terms of its own
negation:

Then we can derive absurdity, if we have as structural principles
(i) initial sequents of the form *A* ⊢ *A*, (ii)
the contraction of identical formulas in the antecedent and (iii) the
cut rule at our disposal.

There are various strategies to deal with this phenomenon, depending on which structural rule presupposed one wants to tackle (see Schroeder-Heister, 1992, 2004).

(i) We may restrict initial sequents *A*⊢*A* to
those cases, where there is no definitional clause for *A*
available, i.e. where *A* cannot be introduced by definitional
closure of definitional reflection. The rationale behind this proposal
is that, if *A* has a definitional meaning, then *A*
should be introduced according to its meaning and not in an unspecific
way. This corresponds to the idea of the logical sequent calculus, in
which one often restricts initial sequents to the atomic case, i.e., to
the case, where no meaning-determining right and left introduction
rules are available. If we impose this restriction on the definition of
*R*, then the above derivation is no longer well-formed. As
there is a definitional rule for *R*, we are not entitled to use
the initial sequent *R* ⊢*R*. On the other hand,
the initial sequent is not reducible to any other, more elementary
initial sequent which is permitted. This way of proceeding was proposed
by Kreuger (1994) and is related to using a certain three-valued
semantics for logic programming (see Jäger and Stärk,
1998).

(ii) If we disallow contraction, the above derivation again breaks
down. This is not very surprising, as, since the work of Fitch and
Curry, it is well-known that choosing a logic without contraction
prevents many paradoxes (see the entries on
Curry's paradox and
paradoxes and contemporary Logic).
It would actually be sufficient to
restrict contraction by forbidding only those cases in which the two
expressions being contracted have been introduced in semantically
different ways. This means the following: In the definitional framework
an expression *A* can be introduced either by means of an
initial sequent *A* ⊢ *A* or by one of the two
definitional principles (⊢*A*) or (*A*⊢). In
the first case, *A* is introduced in an *unspecific* way,
i.e., independent of its definition, whereas in the second case,
*A* is introduced in a *specific* way, namely according
to its meaning as given by the definition of *A*. It can be
shown that contraction is only critical (with respect to cut
elimination) if a specific occurrence of *A* is identified with
an unspecific one. This is exactly the situation in the above
derivation: An *R* coming from an initial sequent is contracted
with an *R* coming from definitional reflection.

(iii) If we disallow cut, then again we are not able to derive
absurdity. In fact, it is questionable, why we should assume cut at
all. In standard logic cut is not needed as a primitive rule, since it
is admissible. We can simply read the above example as demonstrating
that the rule of cut is not admissible in the system without cut, as
there is no other rule that can generate ⊢⊥. Instead of
discussing whether we should force cut by making it a primitive rule,
we can inversely use the admissibility or non-admissibility of cut to
be a feature by means of which we classify definitions. Certain
definitions admit cut, others do not. It is a main task of the theory
of definitional reflection to sort definitions according to whether
they render cut admissible. As stressed by Hallnäs (1991), this is
comparable to the situation in recursion theory where one considers
partial recursive functions. There the fact that a well-defined partial
recursive function is total is a behavioral feature of the function
defined and not a syntactic feature of its recursive definition (in
fact, it is undecidable in general). For example, one sufficient
condition for cut with cut formula *A* to be admissible is that
the definition of *A* is well-founded, i.e. every chain of
definitional successors starting with *A* terminates. Another
condition is that the bodies of the definitional clauses for *A*
do not contain structural implication. Giving up well-foundedness as a
definitional principle is not so strange as it might appear at first
sight. In the revision theory of truth (see Kremer, 2009), the
investigations that have started with the works of Kripke, Gupta,
Herzberger and Belnap have shown that the exclusion of
non-wellfoundedness obstructs the view on interesting phenomena.

In a typed version, where cut takes the form of a substitution rule:

one might consider to restrict cut locally to those cases in which
it generates a normalizable term *s*[*x∕t*]. In
Schroeder-Heister (2012b) this is seen as an argument for the sequent
calculus as the appropriate formal model of deductive reasoning, since
only the sequent calculus has this local substitution rule. In natural
deduction, where one would have to restrict the application of modus
ponens to non-critical cases, substitution is built into the general
framework as a global principle. Within a natural-deduction framework,
Tranchini (2012b—see Other Internet Resources) has
proposed to consider derivations of absurdity as
“arguments” rather than “proofs”, understanding
arguments as senses of derivations and proofs as their denotations, so
that a non-normalizable derivation of absurdity is meaningful, but
lacks a denotation. This approach, which builds on Prawitz's
(1965, App. B) observation that the derivation of Russell's
paradox is non-normalizable and Tennant's (1982) corresponding
analysis of many well-known paradoxes, contributes to the research
programme to apply Frege's semantical distinction between sense
and denotation to proofs. This research programme aims at a distinction
within the concept of proof and thus goes beyond the distinction
between a proof as an intensional entity and what is proved as its
extensional result, from which this article started (see section
2.1).