## Notes to The Problem of Evil

1. For additional critical discussion of this, see Conway (1988), p. 35, and Robert Adams (1985), pp. 225 and 240.

2. One feature of the above
formulation of the argument should be noted, namely, that the
predicate ‘*x* prevents the existence of *y*’
introduces an intensional context; the fact that *x* prevents
the existence of *y* entails the non-existence of *y*.
Since intensional contexts are rather puzzling from a logical point
of view, one might very well prefer to avoid this. This could be
done by recasting the argument so that one talks instead of
preventing the existence of states of affairs of a given type. See
the supplementary document
An Alternative Formulation of the Argument

3. The page references for
Paul Draper’s 1989 article are to the reprinting of it in Daniel
Howard-Snyder (ed.), *The Evidential Argument from Evil*,
Bloomington and Indianapolis: Indiana University Press, 1996,
pp. 12-29.

4. Draper himself formulates
his argument in terms of epistemic probability, which he explains as
follows: “Relative to *K*, *p* is epistemically more
probable than *q*, where *K* is an epistemic situation
and *p* and *q* are propositions, just in case any fully
rational person in *K* would have a higher degree of belief in
*p* than in *q*.” (27) For those who hold, as I do,
that the concept of logical probability is acceptable, the concept of
the epistemic probability of *p* given *q*, relative to
an epistemic situation *K*, can be defined as the logical
probability of *p* given *q* and *K*.

5. This replacement
presupposes either that one is using the notion of logical
probability, or that one has not only the comparative concept of
*p*’s being epistemically more probable than *q*,
relative to the epistemic situation *K*, but also the
quantitative concept of *p*’s having a certain epistemic
probability given *q*, relative to *K*. (Compare
footnote 3.)

6. In his discussion “Rowe versus Plantinga on the Argument from Evil”.

7.. Bovens, in his discussion of Rowe's argument, makes use of precisely these connections in an attempt to provide support for proposition (5).