Notes to Immanuel Kant

1. The best biography of Kant, on which this section draws, is Kuehn 2001.

2. Kuehn 2001, 38, 44. See also 54.

3. On Kant’s intellectual development and pre-critical thought, see Walford and Meerbote 1992, Beiser 1992, Laywine 1993, Schönfeld 2000, Kanterian 2018, Allison 2020, and Kant, Immanuel: philosophical development.

4. Citations from Kant’s texts refer to volume and page numbers in the Akademie edition (see bibliography), except for references to the Critique of Pure Reason, which is cited by page numbers in the original first (A) and second (B) editions. All quotations from Kant follow, with some minor alterations, the English translations in The Cambridge Edition of the Works of Immanuel Kant (see bibliography). 

5. See Gardner 1999, chapters 1-2; and Beiser 2000.

6. Bird 2006, 31.

7. In the Prolegomena, Kant renames it “critical idealism,” but this name did not stick (4:293).

8. See also A369, which however occurs only in the first edition. For further discussion, see Kant, Immanuel: views on space and time.

9. Garve’s original review was drastically shortened, heavily edited, and published anonymously by Feder in January, 1782. Kant replied directly in the Prolegomena (4:372ff.). Both Garve’s original review and the version edited by Feder are translated and discussed in Sassen 2000.

10. Recent proponents of the two-objects interpretation include Strawson 1966, Aquila 1983, Guyer 1987, Van Cleve 1999, and Jankowiak 2017.

11. Recent proponents of the two-aspects interpretation include Bird 1962, Bird 2006, Prauss 1974, Langton 1998, Allison 2004, and Allais 2015.

12. For example, Bxviii–xix, A38–39/B55–56, A42/B59, A247/B303, A490–491/B518–519, and passages about the problematic boundary concept of noumena in the chapter on Phenomena and Noumena and at the end of the Amphiboly.

13. For examples and discussion, see Robinson 1994 and Ameriks 1992. See also Allison’s replies in Allison 1996, chapter 1.

14. For example, see Henrich 1969; Henrich 1976; Ameriks 1978; Guyer 1987, part II; Guyer 1992; Kitcher 2011; Longuenesse 1998; Longuenesse 2005, part I; Allison 2004, chapter 7;  Bird 2006, chapters 13–16; and Allison 2015. See also Kant, Immanuel: theory of judgment, Kant, Immanuel: transcendental arguments, and Kant, Immanuel: view of mind and consciousness of self.

15. See also A116 and Guyer 1987, 132–139.

16. In fact, these too are judgments, which in the Prolegomena Kant calls judgments of perception (4:298–299). But they are judgments about my subjective states rather than about objects distinct from me. As judgments they have a truth value: it is either true or false that I feel nostalgia when I see this house. Kant’s point, however, is that I can make such judgments about my own subject only if I also make judgments about objects distinct from me. Merely subjective judgments of perception are parasitic on objectively valid judgments of experience, because self-consciousness requires that I place myself in an objective world and refer at least some of my representations to objects distinct from me. See Beck 1978.

17. See A66–83/B91–116, B159, and Longuenesse (2006).

18. Kant calls space, in particular, an “ens imaginarium” or being of the imagination to emphasize that on his view we are not somehow conscious of the whole of space, which he also describes as “an infinite given magnitude” (292/B348–349, A25/B39). Rather, we are conscious of space only to the extent that we represent objects in it, but we must represent objects in a single space and cannot represent any boundaries of space. See Longuenesse 2005, chapter 3.

19. See Kemp Smith 1923, 2; and Kant, Immanuel: account of reason.

20. See Grier 2001, Rohlf 2010, Willaschek 2018, and Kant, Immanuel: critique of metaphysics

21. See Wood 1984, Allison 1990, and Allison 2020. Kant’s important discussions of freedom include not only the texts cited here from the Critique of Practical Reason, but also the third antinomy and its resolution in the Critique of Pure Reason and section III of the Groundwork.

23. See Rohlf 2010.

24. See Beck 1960, 244–45; and Wood 1970, 95–96.

25. See Silber 1959; Wood 1970, 94–95; Reath 1988; and Engstrom 1992, 776–777.

26. See Wood 1970, chapter 4; Guyer 2000, chapter 10; and Kant, Immanuel: philosophy of religion.

27. Rohlf 2008 develops another way of understanding this problem that emphasizes its moral significance for Kant.

28. See Ginsborg 1990, Guyer 1997; Allison 2001; Zuckert 2007; and Kant, Immanuel: aesthetics and teleology.

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