Karl Marx

First published Tue Aug 26, 2003; substantive revision Mon Dec 21, 2020

Karl Marx (1818–1883) is often treated as a revolutionary, an activist rather than a philosopher, whose works inspired the foundation of many communist regimes in the twentieth century. It is certainly hard to find many thinkers who can be said to have had comparable influence in the creation of the modern world. However, Marx was trained as a philosopher, and although often portrayed as moving away from philosophy in his mid-twenties—perhaps towards history and the social sciences—there are many points of contact with modern philosophical debates throughout his writings.

The themes picked out here include Marx’s philosophical anthropology, his theory of history, his economic analysis, his critical engagement with contemporary capitalist society (raising issues about morality, ideology, and politics), and his prediction of a communist future.

Marx’s early writings are dominated by an understanding of alienation, a distinct type of social ill whose diagnosis looks to rest on a controversial account of human nature and its flourishing. He subsequently developed an influential theory of history—often called historical materialism—centred around the idea that forms of society rise and fall as they further and then impede the development of human productive power. Marx increasingly became preoccupied with an attempt to understand the contemporary capitalist mode of production, as driven by a remorseless pursuit of profit, whose origins are found in the extraction of surplus value from the exploited proletariat. The precise role of morality and moral criticism in Marx’s critique of contemporary capitalist society is much discussed, and there is no settled scholarly consensus on these issues. His understanding of morality may be related to his account of ideology, and his reflection on the extent to which certain widely-shared misunderstandings might help explain the stability of class-divided societies. In the context of his radical journalism, Marx also developed his controversial account of the character and role of the modern state, and more generally of the relation between political and economic life. Marx sees the historical process as proceeding through a series of modes of production, characterised by (more or less explicit) class struggle, and driving humankind towards communism. However, Marx is famously reluctant to say much about the detailed arrangements of the communist alternative that he sought to bring into being, arguing that it would arise through historical processes, and was not the realisation of a pre-determined plan or blueprint.

1. Life and Writings

1.1 Early Years

Karl Marx was born in 1818, one of nine children. The family lived in the Rhineland region of Prussia, previously under French rule. Both of his parents came from Jewish families with distinguished rabbinical lineages. Marx’s father was a lawyer who converted to Christianity when it became necessary for him to do so if he was to continue his legal career.

Following an unexceptional school career, Marx studied law and philosophy at the universities of Bonn and Berlin. His doctoral thesis was in ancient philosophy, comparing the philosophies of nature of Democritus (c.460–370 BCE) and Epicurus (341–270 BCE). From early 1842, he embarked on a career as a radical journalist, contributing to, and then editing, the Rheinische Zeitung, until the paper was closed by the Prussian authorities in April 1843.

Marx married Jenny von Westphalen (1814–1881), his childhood sweetheart, in June 1843. They would spend their lives together and have seven children, of whom just three daughters—Jenny (1844–1883), Laura (1845–1911), and Eleanor (1855–1898)—survived to adulthood. Marx is also widely thought to have fathered a child—Frederick Demuth (1851–1929)—with Helene Demuth (1820–1890), housekeeper and friend of the Marx family.

Marx’s adult life combined independent scholarship, political activity, and financial insecurity, in fluctuating proportions. Political conditions were such, that, in order to associate and write as he wished, he had to live outside of Germany for most of this time. Marx spent three successive periods of exile in the capital cities of France, Belgium, and England.

1.2 Paris

Between late 1843 and early 1845, Marx lived in Paris, a cosmopolitan city full of émigrés and radical artisans. He was subsequently expelled by the French government following Prussian pressure. In his last months in Germany and during this Paris exile, Marx produced a series of “early writings”, many not intended for publication, which significantly altered interpretations of his thought when they were published collectively in the twentieth century. Papers that actually saw publication during this period include: “On the Jewish Question” (1843) in which Marx defends Jewish Emancipation against Bruno Bauer (1809–1882), but also emphasises the limitations of “political” as against “human” emancipation; and the “Critique of Hegel’s Philosophy of Right: Introduction” (1844) which contains a critical account of religion, together with some prescient remarks about the emancipatory potential of the proletariat. The most significant works that Marx wrote for self-clarification rather than publication in his Paris years are the so-called “1844 Manuscripts” (1844) which provide a suggestive account of alienation, especially of alienation in work; and the “Theses on Feuerbach” (1845), a set of epigrammatic but rich remarks including reflections on the nature of philosophy.

1.3 Brussels

Between early 1845 and early 1848, Marx lived in Brussels, the capital of a rapidly industrialising Belgium. A condition of his residency was to refrain from publishing on contemporary politics, and he was eventually expelled after political demonstrations involving foreign nationals took place. In Brussels Marx published The Holy Family (1845), which includes contributions from his new friend and close collaborator Friedrich Engels (1820–1895), continuing the attack on Bruno Bauer and his followers. Marx also worked, with Engels, on a series of manuscripts now usually known as The German Ideology (1845–46), a substantial section of which criticises the work of Max Stirner (1806–1856). Marx also wrote and published The Poverty of Philosophy (1847) which disparages the social theory of Pierre-Joseph Proudhon (1809–1865). All these publications characteristically show Marx developing and promoting his own views through fierce critical attacks on contemporaries, often better-known and more established than himself.

Marx was politically active throughout his adult life, although the events of 1848—during which time he returned to Paris and Cologne—inspired the first of two periods of especially intense activity. Two important texts here are The Communist Manifesto (1848) which Marx and Engels published just before the February Revolution, and, following his move to London, The Class Struggles in France (1850) in which Marx examined the subsequent failure of 1848 in France. Between these two dates, Marx commented on, and intervened in, the revolution in Germany through the Neue Rheinische Zeitung (1848–49), the paper he helped to establish and edit in Cologne.

1.4 London

For well over half of his adult life—from late 1849 until his death in 1883—Marx lived in London, a city providing a secure haven for political exiles and a superb vantage point from which to study the world’s most advanced capitalist economy. This third and longest exile was dominated by an intellectual and personal struggle to complete his critique of political economy, but his theoretical output extended far beyond that project.

Marx’s initial attempt to make sense of Napoleon III’s rise to power in contemporary France is contained in The Eighteenth Brumaire of Louis Bonaparte (1852). Between 1852 and 1862 Marx also wrote well over three hundred articles for the New York Daily Tribune; sometimes unfairly disparaged as merely income-generating journalism, they frequently contain illuminating attempts to explain contemporary European society and politics (including European interventions in India and China) to an American audience (helpfully) presumed to know little about them.

The second of Marx’s two especially intense periods of political activity—after the revolutions of 1848—centred on his involvement in the International Working Men’s Association between 1864 and 1874, and the events of the Paris Commune (1871), in particular. The character and lessons of the Commune—the short-lived, and violently suppressed, municipal rebellion that controlled Paris for several months in the aftermath of the Franco-Prussian war—are discussed in The Civil War in France (1871). Also politically important was Marx’s “Critique of the Gotha Programme” (1875), in which he criticises the theoretical influence of Ferdinand Lassalle (1825–1864) on the German labour movement, and portrays the higher stage of a future communist society as endorsing distribution according to “the needs principle”.

Marx’s critique of political economy remains controversial. He never succeeded in fixing and realising the wider project that he envisaged. Volume One of Capital, published in 1867, was the only significant part of the project published in his own lifetime, and even here he was unable to resist heavily reworking subsequent editions (especially the French version of 1872–75). What we now know as Volume Two and Volume Three of Capital were put together from Marx’s raw materials by Engels and published in 1885 and 1894, respectively, and Marx’s own drafts were written before the publication of Volume One and barely touched by him in the remaining fifteen years of his life. An additional three supplementary volumes planned by Engels, and subsequently called Theories of Surplus Value (or, more colloquially, the “fourth volume of Capital”) were assembled from remaining notes by Karl Kautsky (1854–1938), and published between 1905 and 1910. (The section of the “new MEGA”—see below—concerned with Capital-related texts contains fifteen thick volumes, and provides some sense of the extent and character of these later editorial interventions.) In addition, the publication in 1953—a previous two-volume edition (1939 and 1941) had only a highly restricted circulation—of the so-called Grundrisse (written in 1857–58) was also important. Whether this text is treated as a freestanding work or as a preparatory step towards Capital, it raises many questions about Marx’s method, his relation to G.W.F. Hegel (1770–1831), and the evolution of Marx’s thought. In contrast, the work of political economy that Marx did publish in this period—A Contribution to a Critique of Political Economy (1859)—was largely ignored by both contemporaries and later commentators, except for the, much reprinted and discussed, summary sketch of his theory of history that Marx offered in the so-called “1859 Preface” to that volume.

Marx’s later years (after the Paris Commune) are the subject of much interpretative disagreement. His inability to deliver the later volumes of Capital is often seen as emblematic of a wider and more systematic intellectual failure (Stedman Jones 2016). However, others have stressed Marx’s continued intellectual creativity in this period, as he variously rethought his views about: the core and periphery of the international economic system; the scope of his theory of history; social anthropology; and the economic and political evolution of Russia (Shanin 1983; K. Anderson 2010).

After the death of his wife, in 1881, Marx’s life was dominated by illness, and travel aimed at improving his health (convalescent destinations including the Isle of Wight, Karlsbad, Jersey, and Algiers). Marx died in March 1883, two months after the death of his eldest daughter. His estate was valued at £250.

Engels’s wider role in the evolution of, and, more especially the reception and interpretation of, Marx’s work is much disputed. The truth here is complex, and Engels is not always well-treated in the literature. Marx and Engels are sometimes portrayed as if they were a single entity, of one mind on all matters, whose individual views on any topic can be found simply by consulting the other. Others present Engels as the distorter and manipulator of Marx’s thought, responsible for any element of Marxian theory with which the relevant commentator might disagree. Despite their familiarity, neither caricature seems plausible or fair. The best-known jointly authored texts are The Holy Family, the “German Ideology” manuscripts, and The Communist Manifesto, but there are nearly two hundred shorter items that they both contributed to (Draper 1985: 2–19).

Many of Marx’s best-known writings remained unpublished before his death. The attempt to establish a reliable collected edition has proved lengthy and fraught. The authoritative Marx-Engels-Gesamtausgabe, the so-called “new MEGA” (1975–), is still a work in progress, begun under Soviet auspices but since 1990 under the guidance of the “International Marx-Engels Stiftung” (IMES). In its current form—much scaled-down from its original ambitions—the edition will contain some 114 volumes (well over a half of which are published at the time of writing). In addition to his various published and unpublished works, it includes Marx’s journalism, correspondence, drafts, and (some) notebooks. Texts are published in their original language (variously German, English, and French). For those needing to utilise English-language resources, the fifty volume Marx Engels Collected Works (1975–2004) can be recommended. (References to Marx and Engels quotations here are to these MECW volumes.) There are also several useful single volume selections of Marx and Engels writings in English (including Marx 2000).

2. Alienation and Human Flourishing

2.1 The Basic Idea

Alienation is a concept especially, but not uniquely, associated with Marx’s work, and the intellectual tradition that he helped found. It identifies a distinct kind of social ill, involving a separation between a subject and an object that properly belong together. The subject here is typically an individual or a group, while the object is usually an “entity” which variously is not itself a subject, is another subject(s), or is the original subject (that is, the relation here can be reflexive). And the relation between the relevant subject and object is one of problematic separation. Both elements of that characterisation are important. Not all social ills, of course, involve separations; for instance, being overly integrated into some object might be dysfunctional, but it is not characteristic of alienation. Moreover, not all separations are problematic, and accounts of alienation typically appeal to some baseline unity or harmony that is frustrated or violated by the separation in question.

Theories of alienation vary considerably, but frequently: first, identify a subset of these problematic separations as being of particular importance; second, include an account (sometimes implicit) of what makes the relevant separations problematic; and, third, propound some explanatory claims about the extent of, and prognosis for, alienation, so understood.

2.2 Religion and Work

Marx’s ideas concerning alienation were greatly influenced by the critical writings on religion of Ludwig Feuerbach (1804–1872), and especially his The Essence of Christianity (1841). One key text in this respect is Marx’s “Contribution of Hegel’s Critique of Right: Introduction” (1843). This work is home to Marx’s notorious remark that religion is the “opium of the people,” a harmful, illusion-generating painkiller (MECW 3: 175). It is here that Marx sets out his account of religion in most detail.

While traditional Christian theology asserts that God created man in God’s own image, Marx fully accepted Feuerbach’s inversion of this picture, proposing that human beings had invented God in their own image; indeed a view that long pre-dated Feuerbach. Feuerbach’s distinctive contribution was to argue that worshipping God diverted human beings from enjoying their own human powers. In their imagination humans raise their own powers to an infinite level and project them on to an abstract object. Hence religion is a form of alienation, for it separates human beings from their “species essence.” Marx accepted much of Feuerbach’s account but argues that Feuerbach failed to understand why people fall into religious alienation, and so is unable to explain how it can be transcended. Feuerbach’s view appears to be that belief in religion is purely an intellectual error and can be corrected by persuasion. Marx’s explanation is that religion is a response to alienation in material life, and therefore cannot be removed until human material life is emancipated, at which point religion will wither away.

Precisely what it is about material life that creates religion is not set out with complete clarity. However, it seems that at least two aspects of alienation are responsible. One is alienated labour, which will be explored shortly. A second is the need for human beings to assert their communal essence. Whether or not we explicitly recognise it, human beings exist as a community, and what makes human life possible is our mutual dependence on the vast network of social and economic relations which engulf us all, even though this is rarely acknowledged in our day-to-day life. Marx’s view appears to be that we must, somehow or other, acknowledge our communal existence in our institutions. At first it is “deviously acknowledged” by religion, which creates a false idea of a community in which we are all equal in the eyes of God. After the post-Reformation fragmentation of religion, where religion is no longer able to play the role even of a fake community of equals, the modern state fills this need by offering us the illusion of a community of citizens, all equal in the eyes of the law. Interestingly, the political or liberal state, which is needed to manage the politics of religious diversity, takes on the role offered by religion in earlier times of providing a form of illusory community. But the political state and religion will both be transcended when a genuine community of social and economic equals is created.

Although Marx was greatly inspired by thinking about religious alienation, much more of his attention was devoted to exploring alienation in work. In a much-discussed passage from the 1844 Manuscripts, Marx identifies four dimensions of alienated labour in contemporary capitalist society (MECW 3: 270–282). First, immediate producers are separated from the product of their labour; they create a product that they neither own nor control, indeed, which comes to dominate them. (Note that this idea of “fetishism”—where human creations escape our control, achieve the appearance of independence, and come to oppress us—is not to be equated with alienation as such, but is rather one form that it can take.) Second, immediate producers are separated from their productive activity; in particular, they are forced to work in ways which are mentally and/or physically debilitating. Third, immediate producers are separated from other individuals; contemporary economic relations socialise individuals to view others as merely means to their own particular ends. Fourth, and finally, immediate producers are separated from their own human nature; for instance, the human capacities for community and for free, conscious, and creative, work, are both frustrated by contemporary capitalist relations.

Note that these claims about alienation are distinct from other, perhaps more familiar, complaints about work in capitalist society. For instance, alienated labour, as understood here, could be—even if it is often not—highly remunerated, limited in duration, and relatively secure.

Marx holds that work has the potential to be something creative and fulfilling. He consequently rejects the view of work as a necessary evil, denying that the negative character of work is part of our fate, a universal fact about the human condition that no amount of social change could remedy. Indeed, productive activity, on Marx’s account, is a central element in what it is to be a human being, and self-realisation through work is a vital component of human flourishing. That he thinks that work—in a different form of society—could be creative and fulfilling, perhaps explains the intensity and scale of Marx’s condemnation of contemporary economic arrangements and their transformation of workers into deformed and “dehumanised” beings (MECW 3: 284).

It was suggested above that alienation consists of dysfunctional separations—separations between entities that properly belong together—and that theories of alienation typically presuppose some baseline condition whose frustration or violation by the relevant separation identifies the latter as dysfunctional. For Marx, that baseline seems to be provided by an account of human flourishing, which he conceptualises in terms of self-realisation (understood here as the development and deployment of our essential human capacities). Labour in capitalism, we can say, is alienated because it embodies separations preventing the self-realisation of producers; because it is organised in a way that frustrates the human need for free, conscious, and creative work.

So understood, and returning to the four separations said to characterise alienated labour, we can see that it is the implicit claim about human nature (the fourth separation) which identifies the other three separations as dysfunctional. If one subscribed to the same formal model of alienation and self-realisation, but held a different account of the substance of human nature, very different claims about work in capitalist society might result. Imagine a theorist who held that human beings were solitary, egoistic creatures, by nature. That theorist could accept that work in capitalist society encouraged isolation and selfishness, but deny that such results were alienating, because those results would not frustrate their baseline account of what it is to be a human being (indeed, they would rather facilitate those characteristics).

2.3 Alienation and Capitalism

Marx seems to hold various views about the historical location and comparative extent of alienation. These include: that some systematic forms of alienation—presumably including religious alienation—existed in pre-capitalist societies; that systematic forms of alienation—including alienation in work—are only a feature of class divided societies; that systematic forms of alienation are greater in contemporary capitalist societies than in pre-capitalist societies; and that not all human societies are scarred by class division, in particular, that a future classless society (communism) will not contain systematic forms of alienation.

Marx maintains that alienation flows from capitalist social relations, and not from the kind of technological advances that capitalist society contains. His disapproval of capitalism is reserved for its social arrangements and not its material accomplishments. He had little time for what is sometimes called the “romantic critique of capitalism”, which sees industry and technology as the real villains, responsible for devastating the purportedly communitarian idyll of pre-capitalist relations. In contrast, Marx celebrates the bourgeoisie’s destruction of feudal relations, and sees technological growth and human liberation as (at least, in time) progressing hand-in-hand. Industry and technology are understood as part of the solution to, and not the source of, social problems.

There are many opportunities for scepticism here. In the present context, many struggle to see how the kind of large-scale industrial production that would presumably characterise communist society—communism purportedly being more productive than capitalism—would avoid alienation in work. Interesting responses to such concerns have been put forward, but they have typically come from commentators rather than from Marx himself (Kandiyali 2018). This is a point at which Marx’s self-denying ordinance concerning the detailed description of communist society prevents him from engaging directly with significant concerns about the direction of social change.

2.4 Political Emancipation

In the text “On The Jewish Question” (1843) Marx begins to make clear the distance between himself and his radical liberal colleagues among the Young Hegelians; in particular Bruno Bauer. Bauer had recently written against Jewish emancipation, from an atheist perspective, arguing that the religion of both Jews and Christians was a barrier to emancipation. In responding to Bauer, Marx makes one of the most enduring arguments from his early writings, by means of introducing a distinction between political emancipation—essentially the grant of liberal rights and liberties—and human emancipation. Marx’s reply to Bauer is that political emancipation is perfectly compatible with the continued existence of religion, as the contemporary example of the United States demonstrates. However, pushing matters deeper, in an argument reinvented by innumerable critics of liberalism, Marx argues that not only is political emancipation insufficient to bring about human emancipation, it is in some sense also a barrier. Liberal rights and ideas of justice are premised on the idea that each of us needs protection from other human beings who are a threat to our liberty and security. Therefore, liberal rights are rights of separation, designed to protect us from such perceived threats. Freedom on such a view, is freedom from interference. What this view overlooks is the possibility—for Marx, the fact—that real freedom is to be found positively in our relations with other people. It is to be found in human community, not in isolation. Accordingly, insisting on a regime of liberal rights encourages us to view each other in ways that undermine the possibility of the real freedom we may find in human emancipation. Now we should be clear that Marx does not oppose political emancipation, for he sees that liberalism is a great improvement on the systems of feudalism and religious prejudice and discrimination which existed in the Germany of his day. Nevertheless, such politically emancipated liberalism must be transcended on the route to genuine human emancipation. Unfortunately, Marx never tells us what human emancipation is, although it is clear that it is closely related to the ideas of non-alienated labour and meaningful community.

2.5 Remaining Questions

Even with these elaborations, many additional questions remain about Marx’s account. Three concerns are briefly addressed here.

First, one might worry about the place of alienation in the evolution of Marx’s thought. The once-popular suggestion that Marx only wrote about alienation in his early writings—his published and unpublished works from the early 1840s—is not sustained by the textual evidence. However, the theoretical role that the concept of alienation plays in his writings might still be said to evolve. For example, it has been suggested that alienation in the early writings is intended to play an “explanatory role”, whereas in his later work it comes to have a more “descriptive or diagnostic” function (Wood 1981 [2004: 7]).

A second concern is the role of human nature in the interpretation of alienation offered here. In one exegetical variant of this worry, the suggestion is that this account of alienation rests on a model of universal human nature which Marx’s (later) understanding of historical specificity and change prevents him from endorsing. However, there is much evidence against this purported later rejection of human nature (see Geras 1983). Indeed, the “mature” Marx explicitly affirms that human nature has both constant and mutable elements; that human beings are characterised by universal qualities, constant across history and culture, and variable qualities, reflecting historical and cultural diversity (McMurtry 1978: 19–53). One systematic, rather than exegetical, variant of the present worry suggests that we should not endorse accounts of alienation which depend on “thick” and inevitably controversial accounts of human nature (Jaeggi 2016). Whatever view we take of that claim about our endorsement, there seems little doubt about the “thickness” of Marx’s own account of human flourishing. To provide for the latter, a society must satisfy not only basic needs (for sustenance, warmth and shelter, certain climatic conditions, physical exercise, basic hygiene, procreation and sexual activity), but also less basic needs, both those that are not always appreciated to be part of his account (for recreation, culture, intellectual stimulation, artistic expression, emotional satisfaction, and aesthetic pleasure), and those that Marx is more often associated with (for fulfilling work and meaningful community) (Leopold 2007: 227–245).

Third, we may ask about Marx’s attitude towards the distinction sometimes made between subjective and objective alienation. These two forms of alienation can be exemplified separately or conjointly in the lives of particular individuals or societies (Hardimon 1994: 119–122). Alienation is “subjective” when it is characterised in terms of the presence (or absence) of certain beliefs or feelings; for example, when individuals are said to be alienated because they feel estranged from the world. Alienation is “objective” when it is characterised in terms which make no reference to the beliefs or feelings of individuals; for example, when individuals are said to be alienated because they fail to develop and deploy their essential human characteristics, whether or not they experience that lack of self-realisation as a loss. Marx seems to allow that these two forms of alienation are conceptually distinct, but assumes that in capitalist societies they are typically found together. Indeed, he often appears to think of subjective alienation as tracking the objective variant. That said, Marx does allow that they can come apart sociologically. At least, that is one way of reading a passage in The Holy Family where he recognises that capitalists do not get to engage in self-realising activities of the right kind (and hence are objectively alienated), but that—unlike the proletariat—they are content in their estrangement (and hence are lacking subjective alienation), feeling “at ease” in, and even “strengthened” by, it (MECW 4: 36).

3. Theory of History

3.1 Sources

Marx did not set out his theory of history in great detail. Accordingly, it has to be constructed from a variety of texts, both those where he attempts to apply a theoretical analysis to past and future historical events, and those of a more purely theoretical nature. Of the latter, the “1859 Preface” to A Critique of Political Economy has achieved canonical status. However, the manuscripts collected together as The German Ideology, co-written with Engels in 1845-46, are also a much used early source. We shall briefly outline both texts, and then look at the reconstruction of Marx’s theory of history in the hands of his philosophically most influential recent exponent, G.A. Cohen (Cohen 1978 [2001], 1988), who builds on the interpretation of the early Russian Marxist Georgi Plekhanov (1856–1918) (Plekhanov 1895 [1947]).

We should, however, be aware that Cohen’s interpretation is far from universally accepted. Cohen provided his reconstruction of Marx partly because he was frustrated with existing Hegelian-inspired “dialectical” interpretations of Marx, and what he considered to be the vagueness of the influential works of Louis Althusser (1918–1990), neither of which, he felt, provided a rigorous account of Marx’s views. However, some scholars believe that the interpretation that we shall focus on is faulty precisely for its insistence on a mechanical model and its lack of attention to the dialectic. One aspect of this criticism is that Cohen’s understanding has a surprisingly small role for the concept of class struggle, which is often felt to be central to Marx’s theory of history. Cohen’s explanation for this is that the “1859 Preface”, on which his interpretation is based, does not give a prominent role to class struggle, and indeed it is not explicitly mentioned. Yet this reasoning is problematic for it is possible that Marx did not want to write in a manner that would engage the concerns of the police censor, and, indeed, a reader aware of the context may be able to detect an implicit reference to class struggle through the inclusion of such phrases as “then begins an era of social revolution,” and “the ideological forms in which men become conscious of this conflict and fight it out”. Hence it does not follow that Marx himself thought that the concept of class struggle was relatively unimportant. Furthermore, when A Critique of Political Economy was replaced by Capital, Marx made no attempt to keep the 1859 Preface in print, and its content is reproduced just as a very much abridged footnote in Capital. Nevertheless, we shall concentrate here on Cohen’s interpretation as no other account has been set out with comparable rigour, precision and detail.

3.2 Early Formulations

In his “Theses on Feuerbach” (1845) Marx provides a background to what would become his theory of history by stating his objections to “all hitherto existing” materialism and idealism, understood as types of philosophical theories. Materialism is complimented for understanding the physical reality of the world, but is criticised for ignoring the active role of the human subject in creating the world we perceive. Idealism, at least as developed by Hegel, understands the active nature of the human subject, but confines it to thought or contemplation: the world is created through the categories we impose upon it. Marx combines the insights of both traditions to propose a view in which human beings do indeed create —or at least transform—the world they find themselves in, but this transformation happens not in thought but through actual material activity; not through the imposition of sublime concepts but through the sweat of their brow, with picks and shovels. This historical version of materialism, which, according to Marx, transcends and thus rejects all existing philosophical thought, is the foundation of Marx’s later theory of history. As Marx puts it in the “1844 Manuscripts”, “Industry is the actual historical relationship of nature … to man” (MECW 3: 303). This thought, derived from reflection on the history of philosophy, together with his experience of social and economic realities, as a journalist, sets the agenda for all Marx’s future work.

In The German Ideology manuscripts, Marx and Engels contrast their new materialist method with the idealism that had characterised previous German thought. Accordingly, they take pains to set out the “premises of the materialist method”. They start, they say, from “real human beings”, emphasising that human beings are essentially productive, in that they must produce their means of subsistence in order to satisfy their material needs. The satisfaction of needs engenders new needs of both a material and social kind, and forms of society arise corresponding to the state of development of human productive forces. Material life determines, or at least “conditions” social life, and so the primary direction of social explanation is from material production to social forms, and thence to forms of consciousness. As the material means of production develop, “modes of co-operation” or economic structures rise and fall, and eventually communism will become a real possibility once the plight of the workers and their awareness of an alternative motivates them sufficiently to become revolutionaries.

3.3 1859 Preface

In the sketch of The German Ideology, many of the key elements of historical materialism are present, even if the terminology is not yet that of Marx’s more mature writings. Marx’s statement in the “1859 Preface” renders something of the same view in sharper form. Cohen’s reconstruction of Marx’s view in the Preface begins from what Cohen calls the Development Thesis, which is pre-supposed, rather than explicitly stated in the Preface (Cohen 1978 [2001]: 134–174). This is the thesis that the productive forces tend to develop, in the sense of becoming more powerful, over time. The productive forces are the means of production, together with productively applicable knowledge: technology, in other words. The development thesis states not that the productive forces always do develop, but that there is a tendency for them to do so. The next thesis is the primacy thesis, which has two aspects. The first states that the nature of a society’s economic structure is explained by the level of development of its productive forces, and the second that the nature of the superstructure—the political and legal institutions of society—is explained by the nature of the economic structure. The nature of a society’s ideology, which is to say certain religious, artistic, moral and philosophical beliefs contained within society, is also explained in terms of its economic structure, although this receives less emphasis in Cohen’s interpretation. Indeed, many activities may well combine aspects of both the superstructure and ideology: a religion is constituted by both institutions and a set of beliefs.

Revolution and epoch change is understood as the consequence of an economic structure no longer being able to continue to develop the forces of production. At this point the development of the productive forces is said to be fettered, and, according to the theory, once an economic structure fetters development it will be revolutionised—“burst asunder” (MECW 6: 489)—and eventually replaced with an economic structure better suited to preside over the continued development of the forces of production.

In outline, then, the theory has a pleasing simplicity and power. It seems plausible that human productive power develops over time, and plausible too that economic structures exist for as long as they develop the productive forces, but will be replaced when they are no longer capable of doing this. Yet severe problems emerge when we attempt to put more flesh on these bones.

3.4 Functional Explanation

Prior to Cohen’s work, historical materialism had not been regarded as a coherent view within English-language political philosophy. The antipathy is well summed up with the closing words of H.B. Acton’s The Illusion of the Epoch: “Marxism is a philosophical farrago” (1955: 271). One difficulty taken particularly seriously by Cohen is an alleged inconsistency between the explanatory primacy of the forces of production, and certain claims made elsewhere by Marx which appear to give the economic structure primacy in explaining the development of the productive forces. For example, in The Communist Manifesto Marx and Engels state that: “The bourgeoisie cannot exist without constantly revolutionising the instruments of production” (MECW 6: 487). This appears to give causal and explanatory primacy to the economic structure—capitalism—which brings about the development of the forces of production. Cohen accepts that, on the surface at least, this generates a contradiction. Both the economic structure and the development of the productive forces seem to have explanatory priority over each other. Unsatisfied by such vague resolutions as “determination in the last instance”, or the idea of “dialectical” connections, Cohen self-consciously attempts to apply the standards of clarity and rigour of analytic philosophy to provide a reconstructed version of historical materialism.

The key theoretical innovation is to appeal to the notion of functional explanation, also sometimes called “consequence explanation” (Cohen 1978 [2001]: 249–296). The essential move is cheerfully to admit that the economic structure, such as capitalism, does indeed develop the productive forces, but to add that this, according to the theory, is precisely why we have capitalism (when we do). That is, if capitalism failed to develop the productive forces it would disappear. And, indeed, this fits beautifully with historical materialism. For Marx asserts that when an economic structure fails to develop the productive forces—when it “fetters” the productive forces—it will be revolutionised and the epoch will change. So the idea of “fettering” becomes the counterpart to the theory of functional explanation. Essentially fettering is what happens when the economic structure becomes dysfunctional.

Now it is apparent that this renders historical materialism consistent. Yet there is a question as to whether it is at too high a price. For we must ask whether functional explanation is a coherent methodological device. The problem is that we can ask what it is that makes it the case that an economic structure will only persist for as long as it develops the productive forces. Jon Elster has pressed this criticism against Cohen very hard (Elster 1985: 27–35). If we were to argue that there is an agent guiding history who has the purpose that the productive forces should be developed as much as possible then it would make sense that such an agent would intervene in history to carry out this purpose by selecting the economic structures which do the best job. However, it is clear that Marx makes no such metaphysical assumptions. Elster is very critical—sometimes of Marx, sometimes of Cohen—of the idea of appealing to “purposes” in history without those being the purposes of anyone.

Indeed Elster’s criticism was anticipated in fascinating terms by Simone Weil (1909–1943), who links Marx’s appeal to history’s purposes to the influence of Hegel on his thought:

We must remember the Hegelian origins of Marxist thought. Hegel believed in a hidden mind at work in the universe, and that the history of the world is simply the history of this world mind, which, as in the case of everything spiritual, tends indefinitely towards perfection. Marx claimed to “put back on its feet” the Hegelian dialectic, which he accused of being “upside down”, by substituting matter for mind as the motive power of history; but by an extraordinary paradox, he conceived history, starting from this rectification, as though he attributed to matter what is the very essence of mind—an unceasing aspiration towards the best. (Weil 1955 [1958: 43])

Cohen is well aware of the difficulty of appealing to purposes in history, but defends the use of functional explanation by comparing its use in historical materialism with its use in evolutionary biology. In contemporary biology it is commonplace to explain the existence of the stripes of a tiger, or the hollow bones of a bird, by pointing to the function of these features. Here we have apparent purposes which are not the purposes of anyone. The obvious counter, however, is that in evolutionary biology we can provide a causal story to underpin these functional explanations; a story involving chance variation and survival of the fittest. Therefore these functional explanations are sustained by a complex causal feedback loop in which dysfunctional elements tend to be filtered out in competition with better functioning elements. Cohen calls such background accounts “elaborations” and he concedes that functional explanations are in need of elaborations. But he points out that standard causal explanations are equally in need of elaborations. We might, for example, be satisfied with the explanation that the vase broke because it was dropped on the floor, but a great deal of further information is needed to explain why this explanation works.

Consequently, Cohen claims that we can be justified in offering a functional explanation even when we are in ignorance of its elaboration. Indeed, even in biology detailed causal elaborations of functional explanations have been available only relatively recently. Prior to Charles Darwin (1809–1882), or arguably Jean-Baptiste Lamarck (1744–1829), the only candidate causal elaboration was to appeal to God’s purposes. Darwin outlined a very plausible mechanism, but having no genetic theory was not able to elaborate it into a detailed account. Our knowledge remains incomplete in some respects to this day. Nevertheless, it seems perfectly reasonable to say that birds have hollow bones in order to facilitate flight. Cohen’s point is that the weight of evidence that organisms are adapted to their environment would permit even a pre-Darwinian atheist to assert this functional explanation with justification. Hence one can be justified in offering a functional explanation even in the absence of a candidate elaboration: if there is sufficient weight of inductive evidence.

At this point the issue, then, divides into a theoretical question and an empirical one. The empirical question is whether or not there is evidence that forms of society exist only for as long as they advance productive power, and are replaced by revolution when they fail. Here, one must admit, the empirical record is patchy at best, and there appear to have been long periods of stagnation, even regression, when dysfunctional economic structures were not revolutionised.

The theoretical issue is whether a plausible elaborating explanation is available to underpin Marxist functional explanations. Here there is something of a dilemma. In the first instance it is tempting to try to mimic the elaboration given in the Darwinian story, and appeal to chance variations and survival of the fittest. In this case “fittest” would mean “most able to preside over the development of the productive forces”. Chance variation would be a matter of people trying out new types of economic relations. On this account new economic structures begin through experiment, but thrive and persist through their success in developing the productive forces. However the problem is that such an account would seem to introduce a larger element of contingency than Marx seeks, for it is essential to Marx’s thought that one should be able to predict the eventual arrival of communism. Within Darwinian theory there is no warrant for long-term predictions, for everything depends on the contingencies of particular situations. A similar heavy element of contingency would be inherited by a form of historical materialism developed by analogy with evolutionary biology. The dilemma, then, is that the best model for developing the theory makes predictions based on the theory unsound, yet the whole point of the theory is predictive. Hence one must either look for an alternative means of producing elaborating explanation, or give up the predictive ambitions of the theory.

3.5 Rationality

The driving force of history, in Cohen’s reconstruction of Marx, is the development of the productive forces, the most important of which is technology. But what is it that drives such development? Ultimately, in Cohen’s account, it is human rationality. Human beings have the ingenuity to apply themselves to develop means to address the scarcity they find. This on the face of it seems very reasonable. Yet there are difficulties. As Cohen himself acknowledges, societies do not always do what would be rational for an individual to do. Co-ordination problems may stand in our way, and there may be structural barriers. Furthermore, it is relatively rare for those who introduce new technologies to be motivated by the need to address scarcity. Rather, under capitalism, the profit motive is the key. Of course it might be argued that this is the social form that the material need to address scarcity takes under capitalism. But still one may raise the question whether the need to address scarcity always has the influence that it appears to have taken on in modern times. For example, a ruling class’s absolute determination to hold on to power may have led to economically stagnant societies. Alternatively, it might be thought that a society may put religion or the protection of traditional ways of life ahead of economic needs. This goes to the heart of Marx’s theory that man is an essentially productive being and that the locus of interaction with the world is industry. As Cohen himself later argued in essays such as “Reconsidering Historical Materialism” (1988), the emphasis on production may appear one-sided, and ignore other powerful elements in human nature. Such a criticism chimes with a criticism from the previous section; that the historical record may not, in fact, display the tendency to growth in the productive forces assumed by the theory.

3.6 Alternative Interpretations

Many defenders of Marx will argue that the problems stated are problems for Cohen’s interpretation of Marx, rather than for Marx himself. It is possible to argue, for example, that Marx did not have a general theory of history, but rather was a social scientist observing and encouraging the transformation of capitalism into communism as a singular event. And it is certainly true that when Marx analyses a particular historical episode, as he does in the 18th Brumaire of Louis Napoleon (1852), any idea of fitting events into a fixed pattern of history seems very far from Marx’s mind. On other views Marx did have a general theory of history but it is far more flexible and less determinate than Cohen insists (Miller 1984). And finally, as noted, there are critics who believe that Cohen’s interpretation is entirely wrong-headed owing to its dismissive attitude to dialectical reasoning (Sayers 1984 [1990]).

4. Economics

4.1 Reading Capital

How to read Marx’s economic writings, and especially his masterpiece Capital Volume 1, remains a matter of controversy. An orthodox reading is that Marx’s essential task is to contribute to economic theory, based on a modified form of the labour theory of value. Others warn against such a narrow interpretation, pointing out that the character of Marx’s writing and presentation is very far from what one would expect in a standard economic text. Hence William Clare Roberts (2017), for example, argues that Capital Volume 1 is fundamentally a work of political theory, rather than economics. Be that as it may, nevertheless, the work does contain substantial presentation of an economic analysis of capitalism, and it is on this that we will focus here.

4.2 Labour Theory of Value

Capital Volume 1 begins with an analysis of the idea of commodity production. A commodity is defined as a useful external object, produced for exchange on a market. Thus, two necessary conditions for commodity production are: the existence of a market, in which exchange can take place; and a social division of labour, in which different people produce different products, without which there would be no motivation for exchange. Marx suggests that commodities have both use-value—a use, in other words—and an exchange-value—initially to be understood as their price. Use value can easily be understood, so Marx says, but he insists that exchange value is a puzzling phenomenon, and relative exchange values need to be explained. Why does a quantity of one commodity exchange for a given quantity of another commodity? His explanation is in terms of the labour input required to produce the commodity, or rather, the socially necessary labour, which is labour exerted at the average level of intensity and productivity for that branch of activity within the economy. Thus the labour theory of value asserts that the value of a commodity is determined by the quantity of socially necessary labour time required to produce it.

Marx provides a two-stage argument for the labour theory of value. The first stage is to argue that if two objects can be compared in the sense of being put on either side of an equals sign, then there must be a “third thing of identical magnitude in both of them” to which they are both reducible. As commodities can be exchanged against each other, there must, Marx argues, be a third thing that they have in common. This then motivates the second stage, which is a search for the appropriate “third thing”, which is labour in Marx’s view, as the only plausible common element. Both steps of the argument are, of course, highly contestable.

Capitalism can be distinguished from other forms of commodity exchange, Marx argues, in that it involves not merely the exchange of commodities, but the advancement of capital, in the form of money, with the purpose of generating profit through the purchase of commodities and their transformation into other commodities which can command a higher price, and thus yield a profit. Marx claims that no previous theorist has been able adequately to explain how capitalism as a whole can make a profit. Marx’s own solution relies on the idea of exploitation of the worker. In setting up conditions of production the capitalist purchases the worker’s labour power—his or her ability to labour—for the day. The cost of this commodity is determined in the same way as the cost of every other; that is, in terms of the amount of socially necessary labour power required to produce it. In this case the value of a day’s labour power is the value of the commodities necessary to keep the worker alive for a day. Suppose that such commodities take four hours to produce. Accordingly the first four hours of the working day is spent on producing value equivalent to the value of the wages the worker will be paid. This is known as necessary labour. Any work the worker does above this is known as surplus labour, producing surplus value for the capitalist. Surplus value, according to Marx, is the source of all profit. In Marx’s analysis labour power is the only commodity which can produce more value than it is worth, and for this reason it is known as variable capital. Other commodities simply pass their value on to the finished commodities, but do not create any extra value. They are known as constant capital. Profit, then, is the result of the labour performed by the worker beyond that necessary to create the value of his or her wages. This is the surplus value theory of profit.

It appears to follow from this analysis that as industry becomes more mechanised, using more constant capital and less variable capital, the rate of profit ought to fall. For as a proportion less capital will be advanced on labour, and only labour can create value. In Capital Volume 3 Marx does indeed make the prediction that the rate of profit will fall over time, and this is one of the factors which leads to the downfall of capitalism. (However, as pointed out by Paul Sweezy in The Theory of Capitalist Development (1942), the analysis is problematic.) A further consequence of this analysis is a difficulty for the theory that Marx did recognise, and tried, albeit unsuccessfully, to meet also in the manuscripts that make up Capital Volume 3. It follows from the analysis so far that labour-intensive industries ought to have a higher rate of profit than those which use less labour. Not only is this empirically false, it is theoretically unacceptable. Accordingly, Marx argued that in real economic life prices vary in a systematic way from values. Providing the mathematics to explain this is known as the transformation problem, and Marx’s own attempt suffers from technical difficulties. Although there are sophisticated known techniques for solving this problem now there is a question about the degree to which they do rescue Marx’s project. If it is thought that the labour theory of value was initially motivated as an intuitively plausible theory of price then when the connection between price and value is rendered as indirect as it is in the final theory, the intuitive motivation of the theory drains away. Others consider this to be a superficial reading of Marx, and that his general approach allows us to see through the appearances of capitalism to understand its underlying basis, which need not coincide with appearances. How Marx’s theory of capitalism should be read remains an active area of scholarly debate (Heinrich 2012).

A further objection is that Marx’s assertion that only labour can create surplus value is unsupported by any argument or analysis, and can be argued to be merely an artefact of the nature of his presentation. Any commodity can be picked to play a similar role. Consequently, with equal justification one could set out a corn theory of value, arguing that corn has the unique power of creating more value than it costs. Formally this would be identical to the labour theory of value (Roemer 1982). Nevertheless, the claims that somehow labour is responsible for the creation of value, and that profit is the consequence of exploitation, remain intuitively powerful, even if they are difficult to establish in detail.

However, even if the labour theory of value is considered discredited, there are elements of his theory that remain of worth. The Cambridge economist Joan Robinson, in An Essay on Marxian Economics (1942), picked out two aspects of particular note. First, Marx’s refusal to accept that capitalism involves a harmony of interests between worker and capitalist, replacing this with a class-based analysis of the worker’s struggle for better wages and conditions of work, versus the capitalist’s drive for ever greater profits. Second, Marx’s denial that there is any long-run tendency to equilibrium in the market, and his descriptions of mechanisms which underlie the trade-cycle of boom and bust. Both provide a salutary corrective to aspects of orthodox economic theory.

4.3 Exploitation

As noted, traditionally Marx’s definition of exploitation is given in terms of the theory of surplus value, which in turn is taken to depend on the labour theory of value: the theory that the value of any commodity is proportional to the amount of “socially necessary” labour embodied in it. However, the question arises of whether the basic idea of exploitation should be so dependent on a particular theory of value. For if it is, the notion of exploitation becomes vulnerable to Robert Nozick’s objection: that if the labour theory of value can be shown to be faulty, the Marxist theory of exploitation collapses too (Nozick 1974).

Others have felt that it is possible to restore the intuitive core of a Marxist theory of exploitation independent of the labour theory of value (cf. Cohen 1979, Wolff 1999, Vrousalis 2013). John Roemer, to take one leading case, states:

Marxian exploitation is defined as the unequal exchange of labor for goods: the exchange is unequal when the amount of labor embodied in the goods which the worker can purchase with his income … is less than the amount of labor he expended to earn that income.(Roemer 1985: 30)

Suppose I work eight hours to earn my wages. With this perhaps the best thing I can buy is a coat. But imagine that the coat took only a total of four hours to make. Therefore I have exchanged my eight hours work for only four hours of other people’s work, and thereby, on this view, I am exploited.

The definition requires some refinement. For example, if I am taxed for the benefit of those unable to work, I will be exploited by the above definition, but this is not what the definition of exploitation was intended to capture. Worse still, if there is one person exploited much more gravely than anyone else in the economy, then it may turn out that no-one else is exploited. Nevertheless, it should not be difficult to adjust the definition to take account of these difficulties, and as noted several other accounts of Marx-inspired accounts of exploitation have been offered that are independent of the labour theory of value.

Many of these alternative definitions add a notion of unfreedom or domination to unequal exchange of labour and goods (Vrousalis 2013). The exploited person is forced to accept a situation in which he or she just never gets back what they put into the labour process. Now there may be, in particular cases, a great deal to be said about why this is perfectly acceptable from a moral point of view. However, on the face of it such exploitation appears to be unjust. Nevertheless, we will see in the next section why attributing such a position to Marx himself is fraught with difficulty.

5. Morality

5.1 Unpacking Issues

The issue of Marx and morality poses a conundrum. On reading Marx’s works at all periods of his life, there appears to be the strongest possible distaste towards bourgeois capitalist society, and an undoubted endorsement of future communist society. Yet the terms of this antipathy and endorsement are far from clear. Despite expectations, Marx never directly says that capitalism is unjust. Neither does he directly say that communism would be a just form of society. In fact he frequently takes pains to distance himself from those who engage in a discourse of justice, and makes a conscious attempt to exclude direct moral commentary in his own works. The puzzle is why this should be, given the weight of indirect moral commentary one also finds in his writings.

There are, initially, separate questions concerning Marx’s attitude to capitalism and to communism. There are also separate questions concerning his attitude to ideas of justice, and to ideas of morality more broadly concerned. This, then, generates four questions: (a) Did Marx think capitalism unjust?; (b) did he think that capitalism could be morally criticised on other grounds?; (c) did he think that communism would be just? (d) did he think it could be morally approved of on other grounds? These are some of the questions we consider in this section.

5.2 The “Injustice” of Capitalism

The initial argument that Marx must have thought that capitalism is unjust is based on the observation that Marx argued that all capitalist profit is ultimately derived from the exploitation of the worker. Capitalism’s dirty secret is that it is not a realm of harmony and mutual benefit but a system in which one class systematically extracts profit from another. How could this fail to be unjust? Yet it is notable that Marx never explicitly draws such a conclusion, and in Capital he goes as far as to say that such exchange is “by no means an injury to the seller” (MECW 35: 204), which some commentators have taken as evidence that Marx did not think that capitalism was unjust, although other readings are possible.

Allen Wood (1972) is perhaps the leading advocate of the view that Marx did not believe that capitalism is unjust. Wood argues that Marx takes this approach because his general theoretical approach excludes any trans-epochal standpoint from which one can comment on the justice of an economic system. Even though it is acceptable to criticise particular behaviour from within an economic structure as unjust (and theft under capitalism would be an example) it is not possible to criticise capitalism as a whole. This is a consequence of Marx’s analysis of the role of ideas of justice from within historical materialism. Marx claims that juridical institutions are part of the superstructure, and that ideas of justice are ideological. Accordingly, the role of both the superstructure and ideology, in the functionalist reading of historical materialism adopted here, is to stabilise the economic structure. Consequently, to state that something is just under capitalism is simply a judgement that it will tend to have the effect of advancing capitalism. According to Marx, in any society the ruling ideas are those of the ruling class; the core of the theory of ideology.

Ziyad Husami (1978) however, argues that Wood is mistaken, ignoring the fact that for Marx ideas undergo a double determination. We need to differentiate not just by economic system, but also by economic class within the system. Therefore the ideas of the non-ruling class may be very different from those of the ruling class. Of course, it is the ideas of the ruling class that receive attention and implementation, but this does not mean that other ideas do not exist. Husami goes as far as to argue that members of the proletariat under capitalism have an account of justice that matches communism. From this privileged standpoint of the proletariat, which is also Marx’s standpoint, capitalism is unjust, and so it follows that Marx thought capitalism unjust.

Plausible though it may sound, Husami’s argument fails to account for two related points. First, it cannot explain why Marx never explicitly described capitalism as unjust, and second, it overlooks the distance Marx wanted to place between his own scientific socialism, and that of other socialists who argued for the injustice of capitalism. Hence one cannot avoid the conclusion that the “official” view of Marx is that capitalism is not unjust.

Nevertheless, this leaves us with a puzzle. Much of Marx’s description of capitalism—his use of the words “embezzlement”, “robbery” and “exploitation”—belie the official account. Arguably, the only satisfactory way of understanding this issue is, once more, from G.A. Cohen, who proposes that Marx believed that capitalism was unjust, but did not believe that he believed it was unjust (Cohen 1983). In other words, Marx, like so many of us, did not have perfect knowledge of his own mind. In his explicit reflections on the justice of capitalism he was able to maintain his official view. But in less guarded moments his real view slips out, even if never in explicit language. Such an interpretation is bound to be controversial, but it makes good sense of the texts.

Whatever one concludes on the question of whether Marx thought capitalism unjust, it is, nevertheless, obvious that Marx thought that capitalism was not the best way for human beings to live. Points made in his early writings remain present throughout his writings, if no longer connected to an explicit theory of alienation. The worker finds work a torment, suffers poverty, overwork and lack of fulfilment and freedom. People do not relate to each other as humans should. Does this amount to a moral criticism of capitalism or not? In the absence of any special reason to argue otherwise, it simply seems obvious that Marx’s critique is a moral one. Capitalism impedes human flourishing. It is hard to disagree with the judgement that Marx

thinks that the capitalist exploitation of labor power is a wrong that has horrendous consequences for the laborers. (Roberts 2017: 129)

Marx, though, once more refrained from making this explicit; he seemed to show no interest in locating his criticism of capitalism in any of the traditions of moral philosophy, or explaining how he was generating a new tradition. There may have been two reasons for his caution. The first was that while there were bad things about capitalism, there is, from a world historical point of view, much good about it too. For without capitalism, communism would not be possible. Capitalism is to be transcended, not abolished, and this may be difficult to convey in the terms of moral philosophy.

Second, and perhaps more importantly, we need to return to the contrast between Marxian and other forms of socialism. Many non-Marxian socialists appealed to universal ideas of truth and justice to defend their proposed schemes, and their theory of transition was based on the idea that appealing to moral sensibilities would be the best, perhaps only, way of bringing about the new chosen society. Marx wanted to distance himself from these other socialist traditions, and a key point of distinction was to argue that the route to understanding the possibilities of human emancipation lay in the analysis of historical and social forces, not in morality. Hence, for Marx, any appeal to morality was theoretically a backward step.

5.3 Communism and “Justice”

This leads us now to Marx’s assessment of communism. Would communism be a just society? In considering Marx’s attitude to communism and justice there are really only two viable possibilities: either he thought that communism would be a just society or he thought that the concept of justice would not apply: that communism would transcend justice.

Communism is described by Marx, in the Critique of the Gotha Programme, as a society in which each person should contribute according to their ability and receive according to their need. This certainly sounds like a theory of justice, and could be adopted as such (Gilabert 2015). However, many will hold that it is truer to Marx’s thought to say that this is part of an account in which communism transcends justice, as Lukes has argued (Lukes 1987).

If we start with the idea that the point of ideas of justice is to resolve disputes, then a society without disputes would have no need or place for justice. We can see this by reflecting upon the idea of the circumstances of justice in the work of David Hume (1711–1776). Hume argued that if there was enormous material abundance—if everyone could have whatever they wanted without invading another’s share—we would never have devised rules of justice. And, of course, there are suggestions in Marx’s writings that communism would be a society of such abundance. But Hume also suggested that justice would not be needed in other circumstances; if there were complete fellow-feeling between all human beings, there would be no conflict and no need for justice. Of course, one can argue whether either material abundance or human fellow-feeling to this degree would be possible, but the point is that both arguments give a clear sense in which communism transcends justice.

Nevertheless, we remain with the question of whether Marx thought that communism could be commended on other moral grounds. On a broad understanding, in which morality, or perhaps better to say ethics, is concerned with the idea of living well, it seems that communism can be assessed favourably in this light. One compelling argument is that Marx’s career simply makes no sense unless we can attribute such a belief to him. But beyond this we can be brief in that the considerations adduced in Section 2 above apply again. Communism clearly advances human flourishing, in Marx’s view. The only reason for denying that, in Marx’s vision, it would amount to a good society is a theoretical antipathy to the word “good”. And here the main point is that, in Marx’s view, communism would not be brought about by high-minded benefactors of humanity. Quite possibly his determination to retain this point of difference between himself and other socialists led him to disparage the importance of morality to a degree that goes beyond the call of theoretical necessity.

6. Ideology

6.1 A Critical Account

The account of ideology contained in Marx’s writings is regularly portrayed as a crucial element of his intellectual legacy. It has been identified as among his “most influential” ideas (Elster 1986: 168), and acclaimed as “the most fertile” part of his social and political theory (Leiter 2004: 84). Not least, these views on ideology are said to constitute Marx’s claim to a place—alongside Friedrich Nietzsche (1844–1900) and Sigmund Freud (1856–1939)—as one of the “masters of suspicion”; that is, as an author whose work casts doubt on the transparency of our everyday understandings of both our own identity and the social world we inhabit (Ricouer 1970: 32–33).

Given this enthusiastic reception, it can come as something of a surprise to turn to Marx’s writings and discover how little they contain about ideology, and how inchoate and opaque those infrequent and passing observations on that topic are. There are, of course, some famous quotations, not least from The German Ideology manuscripts. The references there to ideology as involving an “inversion” of the relation between individuals and their circumstances, perhaps analogous to the workings of a “camera obscura”—an optical device which projected an image of its surroundings, upside down but preserving perspective, onto a screen inside—have often mesmerised commentators but not always generated much genuine illumination (MECW 5: 36). The point should not be exaggerated, but these striking images notwithstanding, there is no clear and sustained discussion of ideology in the Marxian corpus.

Many commentators maintain that the search for a single model of ideology in his work has to be given up. Indeed, there is something of an “arms race” in the literature, as commentators discover two, three, even five, competing models of ideology in Marx’s writings (Mepham 1979; Wood 1981 [2004]; Rosen 1996). Most surprisingly, it seems that some licence can be found in Marx’s corpus for three very different ways of thinking about what ideology is. There is textual evidence of his variously utilising: a “descriptive” account of ideology involving a broadly anthropological study of the beliefs and rituals characteristic of certain groups; a “positive” account of ideology as a “worldview” providing the members of a group with a sense of meaning and identity; and a “critical” account seeking to liberate individuals from certain false and misleading forms of understanding (Geuss 1981: 4–26).

It is the last of these—the critical account rather than either of the two “non-critical” accounts—which is central to his wider social and political theory, but this account is itself subject to some considerable interpretative disagreement. Marx’s theory of ideology is usually portrayed as an element in what might be called Marx’s sociology, as distinct from his philosophical anthropology say, or his theory of history (although complexly related to the latter).

6.2 Ideology and Stability

Marx does not view ideology as a feature of all societies, and, in particular, suggests that it will not be a feature of a future communist society. However, ideology is portrayed as a feature of all class-divided societies, and not only of capitalist society—although many of Marx’s comments on ideology are concerned with the latter. The theory of ideology appears to play a role in explaining a feature of class-divided societies which might otherwise appear puzzling, namely what might be called their “stability”; that is, the absence of overt and serious conflict between social classes. This stability is not permanent, but it can last for extended historical periods. This stability appears puzzling to Marx because class-divided societies are flawed in ways which not only frustrate human flourishing, but also work to the material advantage of the ruling minority. Why do the subordinate classes, who form a majority, tolerate these flaws, when resistance and rebellion of various kinds might be in their objective interests?

Marx’s account of the sources of social stability in class-divided societies appeals to both repressive and non-repressive mechanisms. Such societies might often involve the direct repression (or the threat of it) of one group by another, but Marx does not think that this is the whole story. There are also non-repressive sources of social stability, and ideology is usually, and plausibly, considered one of these. Very roughly, Marx’s account of ideology claims that the dominant social ideas in such societies are typically false or misleading in a fashion that works to the advantage of the economically dominant class.

We should note that ideology would seem to be a part and not the whole of Marx’s account of the non-repressive sources of stability in class divided societies. Other factors might include: dull economic pressure, including the daily grind of having to earn a living; doubts—justified or otherwise—about the feasibility of alternatives; sensitivity to the possible costs of radical social change; and collective action problems of various kinds which face those who do want to rebel and resist. Marx does not think individuals are permanently trapped within ideological modes of thinking. Ideology may have an initial hold, but it is not portrayed as impervious to reason and evidence, especially in circumstances in which the objective conditions for social change obtain.

6.3 Characteristics

For Marx ideological beliefs are social in that they are widely shared, indeed so widely-shared that for long periods they constitute the “ruling” or “dominant” ideas in a given class-divided society (MECW 5: 59). And they are social in that they directly concern, or indirectly impact upon, the action-guiding understandings of self and society that individuals have. These action-guiding understandings include the dominant legal, political, religious, and philosophical views within particular class-divided societies in periods of stability (MECW 29: 263).

Not all false or misleading beliefs count for Marx as ideological. Honest scientific error, for example can be non-ideological. And ideological belief can be misleading without being strictly false. For example, defenders of the capitalist economy portray what Marx calls the “wage form”, with its exchange of equivalents, as the whole (rather than a part) of the story about the relation between capital and labour, thereby ignoring the exploitation which occurs in the sphere of production. Indeed, the notion of the “falsity” of ideology needs to be expanded beyond the content of the “ideas” in question, to include cases where their origins are in some way contaminated (Geuss 1981: 19–22). Perhaps the only reason I believe something to be the case is that the belief in question has a consoling effect on me. Arguably such a belief is held ideologically, even if it happens to be true. Nevertheless paradigmatic examples of ideology have a false content. For example, ideology often portrays institutions, policies, and decisions which are in the interests of the economically dominant class, as being in the interests of the society as a whole (MECW 5: 60); and ideology often portrays social and political arrangements which are contingent, or historical, or artificial, as being necessary, or universal, or natural (MECW 35: 605).

In addition to false or misleading content, ideological beliefs typically have at least two additional characteristics, relating to their social origin and their class function. By the “social origin” of ideology is meant that Marx thinks of these ideas as often originating with, and being reinforced by, the complex structure of class-divided societies—a complex structure in which a deceptive surface appearance is governed by underlying essential relations (Geras 1986: 63–84). Capitalism is seen as especially deceptive in appearance; for example, Marx often contrasts the relative transparency of “exploitation” under feudalism, with the way in which the “wage form” obscures the ratio of necessary and surplus labour in capitalist societies. Ideology stems, in part, from this deceptive surface appearance which makes it difficult to grasp the underlying social flaws that benefit the economically dominant class. Marx portrays the striving to uncover essences concealed by misleading appearances as characteristic of scientific endeavour (MECW 37, 804). And, in this context, he distinguishes between classical political economy, which strove—albeit not always successfully—to uncover the essential relations often concealed behind misleading appearances, and what he calls vulgar economy, which happily restricts itself to the misleading appearances themselves (MECW 37, 804).

By the “class function” of ideology is meant that Marx holds that the pervasiveness of ideology is explained by the fact it helps stabilise the economic structure of societies. All sorts of ideas might get generated for all sorts of reasons, but the ones that tend to “stick” (become widely accepted) in class-divided societies do so, not because of their truth, but because they conceal or misrepresent or justify flaws in that society in ways which redound to the benefit of the economically dominant class (Rosen & Wolff 1996: 235–236).

In response critics often see this as just another example of sloppy functional reasoning—purportedly widespread in the Marxist tradition—whereby a general pattern is asserted without the identification of any of the mechanisms which might generate that pattern. In the present case, it is said that Marx never properly explains why the ruling ideas should be those of the ruling class (Elster 1985: 473). Yet there are obvious possible mechanisms here. To give two examples. First, there is the control of the ruling class over the means of mental production, and in particular the print and broadcast media which in capitalist societies are typically owned and controlled by the very wealthy (MECW 5, 59). A second possible mechanism appeals to the psychological need of individuals for invented narratives that legitimise or justify their social position; for instance, Marx identifies a widespread need, in flawed societies, for the consolatory effects of religion (MECW 3, 175).

7. State and Politics

This broad heading—the state and politics—could cover very many different issues. To make the present account manageable, only two are addressed here: Marx’s account of the state in capitalist society; and Marx’s account of the fate of the state in communist society. (Consequently, many other important political issues—the nature of pre-capitalist states, relations between states, the political transition to communism, and so on—are not dealt with.)

7.1 The State in Capitalist Society

Marx offers no unified theoretical account of the state in capitalist society. Instead his remarks on this topic are scattered across the course of his activist life, and deeply embedded in discussions of contemporary events, events which most modern readers will know very little about. Providing some initial order to that complexity, Jon Elster helpfully identifies three different models in Marx’s writings of the relationship, in capitalist society, between the political state, on the one hand, and the economically dominant class, on the other. (The next three paragraphs draw heavily on Elster 1985: 409–437.)

First, the “instrumental” model portrays the state as simply a tool, directly controlled by the economically dominant class, in its own interests, at the expense of the interests both of other classes and of the community as a whole. Marx is usually said to endorse the instrumental account in the Communist Manifesto, where he and Engels insist that “the executive of the modern state is but a committee for managing the common affairs of the whole bourgeoisie” (MECW 6: 486). On this account, the state might also act against the short term, or the factional, interests of particular capitalists. The picture here is of the state as an instrument directed—presumably by a subset of capitalists or their representatives—in ways which promote the long term interests of the bourgeoisie as a whole. The precise mechanisms which might facilitate that result are not clear in Marx’s writings.

Second, the “class balance” model portrays the state as having interests of its own, with capitalist interests as merely one of the strategic limits on its pursuit of these. This model gets its name from the exceptional social circumstances said to explain the independence of the state in this case. In situations where the social power of the two warring classes of contemporary society—capitalists and workers—are very nearly balanced, the political state (and especially the executive) can gain independence from both, exploiting that conflict in order to promote its own interests (the interests of the political caste). Something like this picture appears in Marx’s discussions of the continued existence of certain absolutist states after the revolutions of 1848, and of the Bonapartist state established in France by the coup of Napoleon III in December 1851. The state now competes with capitalists and proletarians (and is not merely the tool of the former), and by “promising each of the major classes to protect it against the other, the government can rule autonomously” (Elster 1985: 425). On this account, the state has interests of its own, but presumably only gets to pursue them if those promises to others are plausible, finding some reflection in its policies and behaviour. Capitalist interests accordingly remain a political constraint, but they are now only one of the factors constraining the state’s actions rather than constituting its primary goal.

Third, the “abdication” model presents the bourgeoisie as staying away from the direct exercise of political power, but doing this because it is in their economic interests to do so. As Elster notes, strictly speaking, “abdication” here covers two slightly different cases—first, where the bourgeoisie abdicate from the political power that they initially controlled (relevant to France); and, second, where the bourgeoisie abstain from taking political power in the first place (relevant to Britain and Germany)—but they can be treated together. In both cases, Marx identifies a situation where “in order to save its purse, [the bourgeoisie] must forfeit the crown” (MECW 11: 143). Where the instrumental picture claims that the state acts in the interests of the capitalist class because it is directly controlled by the latter, the abdication picture advances an explanatory connection between the promotion of bourgeois interests and the retreat from the direct exercise of power. Circumstances obtain where “the political rule of the bourgeoisie” turns out to be “incompatible” with its continued economic flourishing, and the bourgeoisie seeks “to get rid of its own political rule in order to get rid of the troubles and dangers of ruling” (MECW 11: 173). There are several possible explanations of why the bourgeoisie might remain outside of politics in order to promote their own interests. To give three examples: the bourgeoisie might recognise that their own characteristic short-termism could be fatal to their own interests if they exercised direct political as well as economic power; the bourgeoisie might find political rule sufficiently time and effort consuming to withdraw from it, discovering that the economic benefits kept on coming regardless; or the bourgeoisie might appreciate that abdication weakened their class opponents, forcing the proletariat to fight on two fronts (against capital and government) and thereby making it less able to win those struggles.

There are many questions one might have about these three models.

First, one might wonder which of these three models best embodies Marx’s considered view? The instrumental account is the earliest account, which he largely abandons from the early 1850s, presumably noticing how poorly it captured contemporary political realities—in particular, the stable existence of states which were not directly run by the capitalist class, but which still in some way served their interests. That outcome is possible under either of the two other accounts. However, Marx seems to have thought of the class balance model as a temporary solution in exceptional circumstances, and perhaps held that it failed to allow the stable explanatory connection that he sought between the extant political arrangements and the promotion of dominant economic interests. In short, for better or worse, Marx’s considered view looks closer to the abdication account, reflecting his conviction that the central features of political life are explained by the existing economic structure.

Second, one might wonder which model allows greatest “autonomy” to the political state? A weak definition of state autonomy might portray the state as autonomous when it is independent of direct control by the economically dominant class. On this definition, both the class balance and abdication models—but not the instrumental account—seem to provide for autonomy. A stronger definition of state autonomy might require what Elster calls “explanatory autonomy”, which exists

when (and to the extent that) its structure and policies cannot be explained by the interest of an economically dominant class. (Elster 1985: 405)

Only the class balance view seems to allow significant explanatory autonomy. In his preferred abdication account, Marx allows that the state in capitalist society is independent of direct capitalist control, but goes on to claim that its main structures (including that very independence) and policies are ultimately explained by the interests of the capitalist class.

7.2. The Fate of the State in Communist Society

For reasons discussed below (see Section 8), Marx declines to say much about the basic structure of a future communist society. However, in the case of the fate of the state, that reluctance is partially mitigated by his view that the institutional arrangements of the Paris Commune prefigured the political dimensions of communist society.

Marx’s views on the nature and fate of the state in communist society are to be distinguished from his infrequent, and subsequently notorious, use of the term “the dictatorship of the proletariat”. (On the infrequency, context, and content, of these uses see Draper 1986 and Hunt 1974.) The idea of “dictatorship” in this historical context has the (ancient) connotation of emergency rule rather than the (modern) connotation of totalitarianism. Marx’s use makes it clear that any such temporary government should be democratic; for instance, in having majority support, and in preserving democratic rights (of speech, association, and so on). However, it is by definition “extra-legal” in that it seeks to establish a new regime and not to preserve an old one. So understood, the dictatorship of the proletariat forms part of the political transition to communist society (a topic not covered here), rather than part of the institutional structure of communist society itself. The “dictatorial”—that is, the temporary and extra-legal—character of this regime ends with establishment of a new and stable polity, and it is the latter which is discussed here (Hunt 1974: 297).

The character of the state in communist society consists, in part, of its form (its institutional arrangements) and its function (the tasks that it undertakes).

Some sense of the form of the state in communist society can be gained from Marx’s engagement with the Paris Commune. His preferred future political arrangements involve a high degree of participation, and the radical “de-professionalisation” of certain public offices. First, Marx is enthusiastic about regular elections, universal suffrage, mandat impératif, recall, open executive proceedings, decentralisation, and so on. Second, he objects to public offices (in the legislature, executive, and judiciary) being the spoils of a political caste, and sought to make them working positions, remunerated at the average worker’s wage, and regularly circulating (through election). This combination of arrangements has been characterised as “democracy without professionals” (Hunt 1974: 365). Marx saw it as reflecting his view that:

Freedom consists in converting the state from an organ superimposed upon society into one completely subordinate to it. (MECW 24: 94)

Some sense of the function of the state in communist society can be gained from Marx’s distinction between “necessary” tasks that a state would need to undertake in all societies (at least, economically developed societies), and “unnecessary” tasks that a state would only need to undertake in class-divided societies. The difficulty here is less in allowing this distinction, than in deciding what might fall into each category. On the necessary side, Marx appears to require that the state in communist society provide both: democratic solutions to coordination problems (deciding which side of the road traffic should drive on, for instance); and the supply of public goods (health, welfare, education, and so on). On the unnecessary side, Marx seems to think that a communist society might hugely reduce, or even eliminate, the element of organised coercion found in most states (in the form of standing armies, police forces, and so on). At least, this reduction might be feasible once communist society had reached its higher stage (where distribution is based on “the needs principle”), and there is no longer a threat from non-communist societies.

Again, there are many reservations that one might have about this account.

First, many will be sceptical about its feasibility, and perhaps especially of the purported reduction, still less elimination, of state coercion. That scepticism might be motivated by the thought that this would only be possible if communist society were characterised by widespread social and political consensus, and that such consensus is, both unlikely (at least, in modern societies), and undesirable (diversity and disagreement having a value). However, the reduction, or even elimination, of state coercion might be compatible with certain forms of continuing disagreement about the ends and means of communist society. Imagine that a democratic communist polity introduces a new law prohibiting smoking in public places, and that a representative smoker (call her Anne) obeys that law despite being among the minority who wanted this practice permitted. Anne’s motivation for obedience, we can stipulate, is grounded, not in fear of the likely response of bodies of armed persons enforcing the law, but rather in respect for the democratic majority of the community of which she is a part. In short, reasonably strong assumptions about the democratic commitments of individuals might allow the scaling down of organised coercion without having to presume universal agreement amongst citizens on all issues.

Second, some might object to the reference, throughout this section, to the “state” in communist society. It might be said that a polity whose form and functions are so radically transformed—the form by democratic participation and de-professionalisation, the function by eliminating historically unnecessary tasks—is insufficiently “state-like” to be called a state. That is certainly possible, but the terminological claim would appear to assume that there is greater clarity and agreement about just what a state is, either than is presupposed here or than exists in the world. Given that lack of consensus, “state” seems a suitably prudent choice. As well as being consistent with some of Marx’s usage, it avoids prejudging this very issue. However, anyone unmoved by those considerations can simply replace “state”, in this context, with their own preferred alternative.

8. Utopianism

8.1 Utopian Socialism

It is well-known that Marx never provided a detailed account of the basic structure of the future communist society that he predicted. This was not simply an omission on his part, but rather reflects his deliberate commitment, as he colloquially has it, to refrain from writing “recipes” for the “restaurants” of the future (MECW 35: 17, translation amended).

The reasoning that underpins this commitment can be reconstructed from Marx’s engagement with the radical political tradition that he called “utopian socialism”, and whose founding triumvirate were Charles Fourier (1772–1837), Henri Saint-Simon (1760–1825), and Robert Owen (1771–1858). Note that the distinction between Marxian socialism and utopian socialism is not an exhaustive one. Marx happily allows that there are socialists who are neither Marxian nor Utopian; for example, the “feudal socialists” discussed in the Communist Manifesto.

What distinguishes utopian from other socialists is, in large part, their view that providing persuasive constructive plans and blueprints of future socialist arrangements is a legitimate and necessary activity. (The expression “plans and blueprints” is used here to capture the necessary detail of these descriptions, and not to suggest that these designs have to be thought of as “stipulative”, as having to be followed to the letter.) On the utopian account, the socialist future needs to be designed before it can be delivered; the plans and blueprints being intended to guide and motivate socialists in their transformative ambitions. Of course, that Marx is not in this sense utopian does not rule out the possibility of additional (here unspecified) senses in which he might accurately be so described.

Marx’s account of utopian socialism might appear contradictory. It is certainly easy to find not only passages fiercely criticising utopian authors and texts, but also passages generously praising them. However, that criticism and that praise turn out to attach to slightly different targets, revealing an underlying and consistent structure to his account.

That underlying structure rests on two main distinctions. The first distinction is a chronological one running between the founding triumvirate, on the one hand, and second and subsequent generations of utopian socialists, on the other. (These later generations including both loyal followers of the founding triumvirate, and independent later figures such as Étienne Cabet (1788–1856)). The second distinction is a substantive one running between the critical part of utopian writings (the portrayal of faults within contemporary capitalist society), on the one hand, and the constructive part of utopian writings (the detailed description of the ideal socialist future), on the other.

Note that these distinctions underpin the asymmetry of Marx’s assessment of utopian socialism. Simply put: he is more enthusiastic and positive about the achievements of the first generation of utopians, by comparison with those of second and subsequent generations; and he is more enthusiastic and positive about the utopians’ criticism of contemporary society, by comparison with the utopians’ constructive endeavours.

8.2 Marx’s Utopophobia

The remainder of this section will focus on Marx’s disapproval of the constructive endeavours of the utopians.

In trying to organise and understand Marx’s various criticisms of utopianism, it is helpful to distinguish between foundational and non-foundational variants. (This distinction is intended to be exhaustive, in that all of his criticisms of utopianism will fall into one of these two categories.) Non-foundational criticisms of utopian socialism are those which, if sound, would provide us with a reason to reject views which might be held by, or even be characteristic of, utopian socialists, but which are not constitutive of their utopianism. That is, they would give us a reason to abandon the relevant beliefs, or to criticise those (including utopians) who held them, but they would not give us cause to reject utopianism as such. In contrast, foundational criticisms of utopian socialism are those which, if sound, would provide us with a reason to reject utopianism as such; that is, a reason to refrain from engaging in socialist design, a reason not to describe in relevant detail the socialist society of the future. (Of course, that reason might not be decisive, all things considered, but it would still count against utopianism per se.)

Many of Marx’s best-known criticisms of utopian socialism are non-foundational. For instance, in the Communist Manifesto, he complains that utopian socialists hold a mistaken “ahistorical” view of social change. The utopians purportedly fail to understand that the achievement of socialism depends on conditions which can only emerge at a certain stage of historical development. They might, for instance, recognise that there are strategic preconditions for socialism (for instance, the right blueprint and sufficient will to put it into practice), but (mistakenly on Marx’s account) imagine that those preconditions could have appeared at any point in time. This complaint is non-foundational in that one can accept that there are historical conditions for establishing a socialist society, and that the utopian socialists fail to understand this, without thereby having a reason to abandon utopianism as such. A commitment to the necessity and desirability of socialist design does not require one to hold an “ahistorical” view of social change.

Assessing the soundness of non-foundational criticisms, and their relevance to the utopian socialist tradition, is a complicated task (see Leopold 2018). However, even if sound and relevant, these criticisms would provide no reason to abandon utopianism as such. Consequently, they are pursued no further here. Instead, the focus is on the three main foundational arguments against utopianism that can be located in Marx’s writings; namely, that utopian plans and blueprints are necessarily undemocratic, impossible, and redundant (see Leopold 2016).

Marx’s first argument involves a normative claim that utopian plans and blueprints are undemocratic. (“Democracy” here connoting individual and collective self-determination, rather than political forms of governance.) The basic argument runs: that it is undemocratic to limit the self-determination of individuals; that providing a plan or blueprint for a socialist society limits the self-determination of individuals; and that therefore the provision of plans and blueprints for a socialist society is undemocratic. If we add in the assumption that undemocratic means are undesirable; then we can conclude that it is undesirable to provide plans or blueprints of a future socialist society. One central reason for resisting this argument is that it is hard to identify a plausible account of the conditions for self-determination, according to which it is necessarily true that merely providing a socialist plan or blueprint restricts self-determination. Indeed, one might heretically think that detailed plans and blueprints often tend to promote self-determination, helping individuals think about where it is they want to go, and how they want to get there.

Marx’s second argument rests on an epistemological claim that that utopian plans and blueprints are impossible, because they require accurate knowledge of the future of a kind which cannot be had. The basic argument starts from the assumption that to be of any use a blueprint must facilitate the construction of a future socialist society. Moreover, to facilitate the construction of a future socialist society a blueprint must be completely accurate; and to be completely accurate a blueprint must predict all the relevant circumstances of that future society. However, since it is not possible—given the complexity of the social world and the limitations of human nature—to predict all the relevant circumstances of that future society, we can conclude that socialist blueprints are of no use. One central reason for resisting this argument is that, whilst it is hard to deny that completely accurate plans are impossible (given the complexity of the world and the limitations of human understanding), the claim that only completely accurate plans are useful seems doubtful. Plans are not simply predictions, and providing less than wholly accurate plans for ourselves often forms part of the process whereby we help determine the future for ourselves (insofar as that is possible).

Marx’s third argument depends on an empirical claim that utopian plans and blueprints are unnecessary, because satisfactory solutions to social problems emerge automatically from the unfolding of the historical process without themselves needing to be designed. The basic argument runs as follows: that utopian blueprints describe the basic structure of the socialist society of the future; and that such blueprints are necessary if and only if the basic structure of future socialist society needs to be designed. However, given that the basic structure of the future socialist society develops automatically (without design assistance) within capitalist society; and that the role of human agency in this unfolding historical process is to deliver (not design) that basic structure, Marx concludes that utopian blueprints are redundant. Reasons for resisting this argument include scepticism about both Marx’s reasoning and the empirical record. Marx is certain that humankind does not need to design the basic structure of the future socialist society, but it is not really made clear who or what does that designing in its place. Moreover, the path of historical development since Marx’s day does not obviously confirm the complex empirical claim that the basic structure of socialist society is developing automatically within existing capitalism, needing only to be delivered (and not designed) by human agency.

This brief discussion suggests that there are cogent grounds for doubting Marx’s claim that utopian plans and blueprints are necessarily undemocratic, impossible, and redundant.

Finally, recall that Marx is less enthusiastic about the second and subsequent generations of utopians, than he is about the original triumvirate. We might reasonably wonder about the rationale for greater criticism of later utopians. It is important to recognise that it is not that second and subsequent generations make more or grosser errors than the original triumvirate. (Indeed, Marx appears to think that all these different generations largely held the same views, and made the same mistakes). The relevant difference is rather that, by comparison with their successors, this first generation were not to blame for those errors. In short, the rationale behind Marx’s preference for the first over the second and subsequent generations of utopian socialists is based on an understanding of historical development and an associated notion of culpability.

Marx held that the intellectual formation of this first generation took place in a historical context (the cusp of the eighteenth and nineteenth centuries) which was sufficiently developed to provoke socialist criticism, but not sufficiently developed for that socialist criticism to escape serious misunderstandings (Cohen 2000: 51). Since neither the material conditions of modern society, nor the historical agent capable of bringing socialism about, were sufficiently developed, this first generation were bound to develop faulty accounts of the nature of, and transition to, socialism. However, that defence—the historical unavoidability of error—is not available to subsequent generations who, despite significantly changed circumstances, hold fast to the original views of their intellectual forerunners. Marx maintains that more recent utopians, unlike the original triumvirate, really ought to know better.

9. Marx’s Legacy

At this point, we might be expected briefly to survey Marx’s legacy.

That legacy is often elaborated in terms of movements and thinkers. However, so understood, the controversy and scale of that legacy make brevity impossible, and this entry is already long enough. All we can do here is gesture at the history and mention some further reading.

The chronology here might provisionally be divided into three historical periods: from Marx’s death until the Russia Revolution (1917); from the Russian Revolution to the fall of the Berlin Wall (1989); and since 1989. It seems hard to say much that is certain about the last of these periods, but some generalisations about the first two might be hazarded.

That first period of “Classical Marxism” can be thought of in two generational waves. The first smaller group of theorists was associated with the Second International, and includes Karl Kautsky (1854–1938) and Plekhanov. The succeeding more activist generation includes Rosa Luxemburg (1871–1919), V.I. Lenin (1870–1924) and Leon Trotsky (1879–1940).

The second period is perhaps dominated by “Soviet Marxism” and the critical reaction from other Marxists that it provoked. The repressive bureaucratic regimes which solidified in the Soviet Union and Eastern Europe repressed independent theoretical work, including scholarly editorial work on the writings of Marx and Engels. However, they also provoked a critical reaction in the form of a body of thought often called “Western Marxism”, usually said to include the work of Antonio Gramsci (1891–1937), Theodor Adorno (1903–1969), and Althusser. The later parts of this period saw the continuing development of “Critical Theory”, as well as the birth of currents such as “Analytical Marxism” whose longer term impact is uncertain.

These first two periods are both partly covered by the Polish philosopher and historian of ideas, Leszek Kołakowski, in the final two volumes of his encyclopaedic three volume Main Currents of Marxism (1976 [1978]). A succinct critical account of the emergence and distinctive character of Western Marxism is provided by Perry Anderson in his Considerations on Western Marxism (1976). And some of the more philosophically interesting authors in this latter tradition are also covered elsewhere in this Encyclopaedia (see the Related Entries section below). Finally, and edging a little into the third of these historical periods, Christoph Henning offers an account of the (mis) readings of Marx—especially those replacing social theory with moral philosophy—in German philosophy from Heidegger to Habermas and beyond, in his Philosophy After Marx (2014).

However, we might also think of Marx’s legacy, less in terms of thinkers and movements, and more in terms of reasons for wanting to study Marx’s ideas. In that context, we would stress that this is not simply a question of the truth of his various substantive claims. The work of philosophers is, of course, also valued for the originality, insight, potential, and so on, that it may also contain. And, so judged, Marx’s writings have much to offer.

The various strands of Marx’s thought surveyed here include his philosophical anthropology, his theory of history, his critical engagement with the economic and political dimensions of capitalism, and a frustratingly vague outline of what might replace it. Whatever the connections between these threads, it seems implausible to suggest that Marx’s ideas form a system which has to be swallowed or rejected in its entirety. It might, for instance, be that Marx’s diagnosis looks more persuasive than his remedies. Readers may have little confidence in his solutions, but that does not mean that the problems he identifies are not acute.


Primary Literature

  • Feuerbach, Ludwig, 1841, Das Wesen des Christenthums (The Essence of Christianity), Leipzig: Otto Wigand.
  • Marx, Karl and Friedrich Engels, Gesamtausgabe (MEGA), Berlin, 1975–.
  • –––, [MECW] Collected Works, New York and London: International Publishers. 1975.
  • Marx, Karl, Karl Marx: Selected Writings, second edition, David McLellan (ed.), Oxford: Oxford University Press, 2000.

Secondary Literature

  • Acton, H.B., 1955, The Illusion of the Epoch: Marxism-Leninism as a Philosophical Creed, London: Cohen and West.
  • Althusser, Louis, 1969, For Marx, London: Penguin.
  • Althusser, Louis and Étienne Balibar, 1970, Reading “Capital”, Ben Brewster (trans.), London: NLB.
  • Anderson, Kevin B., 2010, Marx at the Margins: On Nationalism, Ethnicity, and Non-Western Societies, Chicago: University of Chicago Press.
  • Anderson, Perry, 1976, Considerations on Western Marxism, London: New Left Books.
  • Arthur, C.J., 1986, Dialectics of Labour, Oxford: Basil Blackwell.
  • Avineri, Shlomo, 1970, The Social and Political Thought of Karl Marx, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press. doi:10.1017/CBO9781139171410
  • Bottomore, Tom (ed.), 1979, Karl Marx, Oxford: Blackwell.
  • Brudney, Daniel, 1998, Marx’s Attempt to Leave Philosophy, Cambridge, MA: Harvard University Press.
  • Carter, Alan B., 1989, Marx: A Radical Critique, Brighton: Harvester-Wheatsheaf.
  • Carver, Terrell, 1982, Marx’s Social Theory, New York: Oxford University Press.
  • ––– (ed.), 1991, The Cambridge Companion to Marx, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press. doi:10.1017/CCOL0521366259
  • –––, 1998, The Post-Modern Marx, Manchester: Manchester University Press.
  • Cohen, G. A., 1979, “The Labor Theory of Value and the Concept of Exploitation”, Philosophy & Public Affairs, 8(4): 338–360.
  • –––, 1983, “Review of Karl Marx, by Allen W Wood”, Mind, 92(367): 440–445. doi:10.1093/mind/XCII.367.440
  • –––, 1988, History, Labour and Freedom, Oxford: Oxford University Press.
  • –––, 1978 [2001], Karl Marx’s Theory of History: A Defence, Princeton, NJ: Princeton University Press. Second edition, Oxford, Oxford University Press, 2001.
  • –––, 2000, If You're an Egalitarian, How Come You're So Rich, Cambridge, MA: Harvard University Press.
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  • Desai, Megnad, 2002, Marx’s Revenge, London: Verso.
  • Draper, Hal, 1985, The Marx-Engels Register. A Complete Bibliography of Marx and Engels’ Individual Writings, New York: Schocken Books.
  • –––, 1986, Karl Marx’s Theory of Revolution, volume three: The “Dictatorship of the Proletariat”, New York: Monthly Review Press.
  • Elster, Jon, 1985, Making Sense of Marx, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
  • Geras, Norman, 1983, Marx and Human Nature, London: Verso Books.
  • –––, 1986, Literature of Revolution. Essays on Marxism, London: Verso Books.
  • –––, 1989, “The Controversy about Marx and Justice”, in Marxist Theory, Alex Callinicos (ed.), Oxford: Oxford University Press, 211–268.
  • Geuss, Raymond, 1981, The Idea of a Critical Theory: Habermas and the Frankfurt School, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
  • Gilabert, Pablo, 2015, “The Socialist Principle ‘From Each According To Their Abilities, To Each According To Their Needs’”, Journal of Social Philosophy, 46(2): 197–225. doi:10.1111/josp.12096
  • Hardimon, Michael O., 1994, Hegel’ Social Philosophy. The Project of Reconciliation, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
  • Heinrich, Michael, 2012, An Introduction to the Three Volumes of Karl Marx’s Capital, New York: Monthly Review Press.
  • Henning, Christoph, 2014, Philosophy After Marx. 100 Years of Misreadings and the Normative Turn in Political Philosophy, The Hague: Brill.
  • Hook, Sidney, 1950, From Hegel to Marx, New York: Humanities Press.
  • Hunt, Richard N., 1974, The Political Ideas of Marx and Engels, volume 1: Marxism and Totalitarian Democracy, 1818–1850, Pittsburgh, PA: University of Pittsburgh Press.
  • Husami, Ziyad I., 1978, “Marx on Distributive Justice”, Philosophy & Public Affairs, 8(1): 27–64.
  • Jaeggi, Rahel, 2016, Alienation, New York: Columbia University Press.
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