The Concept of the Aesthetic

First published Fri Sep 11, 2009; substantive revision Thu Sep 12, 2013

Introduced into the philosophical lexicon during the Eighteenth Century, the term "aesthetic" has come to be used to designate, among other things, a kind of object, a kind of judgment, a kind of attitude, a kind of experience, and a kind of value. For the most part, aesthetic theories have divided over questions particular to one or another of these designations: whether artworks are necessarily aesthetic objects; how to square the allegedly perceptual basis of aesthetic judgments with the fact that we give reasons in support of them; how best to capture the elusive contrast between an aesthetic attitude and a practical one; whether to define aesthetic experience according to its phenomenological or representational content; how best to understand the relation between aesthetic value and aesthetic experience. But questions of more general nature have lately arisen, and these have tended to have a skeptical cast: whether any use of "aesthetic" may be explicated without appeal to some other; whether agreement respecting any use is sufficient to ground meaningful theoretical agreement or disagreement; whether the term ultimately answers to any legitimate philosophical purpose that justifies its inclusion in the lexicon. The skepticism expressed by such general questions did not begin to take hold until the later part of the Twentieth Century, and this fact prompts the question whether (a) the concept of the aesthetic is inherently problematic and it is only recently that we have managed to see that it is, or (b) the concept is fine and it is only recently that we have become muddled enough to imagine otherwise. Adjudicating between these possibilities requires a vantage from which to take in both early and late theorizing on aesthetic matters.

1. The Concept of Taste

The concept of the aesthetic descends from the concept of taste. Why the concept of taste commanded so much philosophical attention during the Eighteenth Century is a complicated matter, but this much is clear: the eighteenth-century theory of taste emerged, in part, as a corrective to the rise of rationalism, particularly as applied to beauty, and to the rise of egoism, particularly as applied to virtue. Against rationalism about beauty, the eighteenth-century theory of taste held the judgment of beauty to be immediate; against egoism about virtue, it held the pleasure of beauty to be disinterested.

1.1 Immediacy

Rationalism about beauty is the view that judgments of beauty are judgments of reason, i.e., that we judge things to be beautiful by reasoning it out, where reasoning it out typically involves inferring from principles or applying concepts. At the beginning of the Eighteenth Century, rationalism about beauty had achieved dominance on the continent, and was being pushed to new extremes by “les géomètres,” a group of literary theorists who aimed to bring to literary criticism the mathematical rigor that Descartes had brought to physics. As one such theorist put it:

The way to think about a literary problem is that pointed out by Descartes for problems of physical science. A critic who tries any other way is not worthy to be living in the present century. There is nothing better than mathematics as propaedeutic for literary criticism. (Terrasson 1715, Preface, 65; quoted in Wimsatt and Brooks 1957, 258)

It was against this, and against more moderate forms of rationalism about beauty, that mainly British philosophers working mainly within an empiricist framework began to develop theories of taste. The fundamental idea behind any such theory—which we may call the immediacy thesis—is that judgments of beauty are not (or at least not primarily) mediated by inferences from principles or applications of concepts, but rather have all the immediacy of straightforwardly sensory judgments; it is the idea, in other words, that we do not reason to the conclusion that things are beautiful, but rather “taste” that they are. Here is an early expression of the thesis, from Jean-Baptiste Dubos's Critical Reflections on Poetry, Painting, and Music, which first appeared in 1719:

Do we ever reason, in order to know whether a ragoo be good or bad; and has it ever entered into any body's head, after having settled the geometrical principles of taste, and defined the qualities of each ingredient that enters into the composition of those messes, to examine into the proportion observed in their mixture, in order to decide whether it be good or bad? No, this is never practiced. We have a sense given us by nature to distinguish whether the cook acted according to the rules of his art. People taste the ragoo, and tho' unacquainted with those rules, they are able to tell whether it be good or no. The same may be said in some respect of the productions of the mind, and of pictures made to please and move us. (Dubos 1748, vol. II, 238–239)

And here is a late expression, from Kant's 1790 Critique of the Power of Aesthetic Judgment:

If someone reads me his poem or takes me to a play that in the end fails to please my taste, then he can adduce Batteux or Lessing, or even older and more famous critics of taste, and adduce all the rules they established as proofs that his poem is beautiful… . I will stop my ears, listen to no reasons and arguments, and would rather believe that those rules of the critics are false … than allow that my judgment should be determined by means of a priori grounds of proof, since it is supposed to be a judgment of taste and not of the understanding of reason. (Kant 1790, 165)

But the theory of taste would not have enjoyed its eighteenth-century run, nor would it continue now to exert its influence, had it been without resources to counter an obvious rationalist objection. There is a wide difference—so goes the objection—between judging the excellence of a ragout and judging the excellence of a poem or a play. More often than not, poems and plays are objects of great complication. But taking in all that complication requires a lot of cognitive work, including the application of concepts and the drawing of inferences. Judging the beauty of poems and plays, then, is evidently not immediate and so evidently not a matter of taste.

The chief way of meeting this objection was first to distinguish between the act of grasping the object preparatory to judging it and the act of judging the object once grasped, and then to allow the former, but not the latter, to be as concept- and inference-mediated as any rationalist might wish. Here is Hume, with characteristic clarity:

[I]n order to pave the way for [a judgment of taste], and give a proper discernment of its object, it is often necessary, we find, that much reasoning should precede, that nice distinctions be made, just conclusions drawn, distant comparisons formed, complicated relations examined, and general facts fixed and ascertained. Some species of beauty, especially the natural kinds, on their first appearance command our affection and approbation; and where they fail of this effect, it is impossible for any reasoning to redress their influence, or adapt them better to our taste and sentiment. But in many orders of beauty, particularly those of the fine arts, it is requisite to employ much reasoning, in order to feel the proper sentiment. (Hume, 1751, Section I)

Hume—like Shaftesbury and Hutcheson before him, and Reid after him (Cooper 1711, 17, 231; Hutcheson 1725, 16–24; Reid 1785, 760–761)—regarded the faculty of taste as a kind of “internal sense.” Unlike the five “external” or “direct” senses, an “internal” (or “reflex” or “secondary”) sense is one that depends for its objects on the antecedent operation of some other mental faculty or faculties. Reid characterizes it as follows:

Beauty or deformity in an object, results from its nature or structure. To perceive the beauty therefore, we must perceive the nature or structure from which it results. In this the internal sense differs from the external. Our external senses may discover qualities which do not depend upon any antecedent perception… . But it is impossible to perceive the beauty of an object, without perceiving the object, or at least conceiving it. (Reid 1785, 760–761)

Because of the highly complex natures or structures of many beautiful objects, there will have to be a role for reason in their perception. But perceiving the nature or structure of an object is one thing. Perceiving its beauty is another.

1.2 Disinterest

Egoism about virtue is the view that to judge an action or trait virtuous is to take pleasure in it because you believe it to serve some interest of yours. Its central instance is the Hobbesian view—still very much on early eighteenth-century minds—that to judge an action or trait virtuous is to take pleasure in it because you believe it to promote your safety. Against Hobbesian egoism a number of British moralists—preeminently Shaftesbury, Hutcheson, and Hume—argued that, while a judgment of virtue is a matter of taking pleasure in response to an action or trait, the pleasure is disinterested, by which they meant that it is not self-interested (Cooper 1711, 220–223; Hutcheson 1725, 9, 25–26; Hume 1751, 218–232, 295–302). One argument went roughly as follows. That we judge virtue by means of an immediate sensation of pleasure means that judgments of virtue are judgments of taste, no less than judgments of beauty. But pleasure in the beautiful is not self-interested: we judge objects to be beautiful whether or not we believe them to serve our interests. But if pleasure in the beautiful is disinterested, there is no reason to think that pleasure in the virtuous cannot also be (Hutcheson 1725, 9–10).

The eighteenth-century view that judgments of virtue are judgments of taste highlights a discontinuity between the eighteenth-century concept of taste and our concept of the aesthetic, since for us the concepts aesthetic and moral tend oppose one another such that a judgment's falling under one typically precludes its falling under the other. Kant is chiefly responsible for removing this discontinuity. He brought the moral and the aesthetic into opposition by re-interpreting what we might call the disinterest thesis—the thesis that pleasure in the beautiful is disinterested (though see Cooper 1711, 222 and Home 2005, 36–38 for anticipations of Kant's re-interpretation).

According to Kant, to say that a pleasure is interested is not to say that it is self-interested in the Hobbesian sense, but rather that it stands in a certain relation to the faculty of desire. The pleasure involved in judging an action to be morally good is interested because such a judgment issues in a desire to bring the action into existence, i.e., to perform it. To judge an action to be morally good is to become aware that one has a duty to perform the action, and to become so aware is to gain a desire to perform it. By contrast, the pleasure involved in judging an object to be beautiful is disinterested because such a judgment issues in no desire to do anything in particular. If we can be said to have a duty with regard to beautiful things, it appears to be exhausted in our judging them aesthetically to be beautiful. That is what Kant means when he says that the judgment of taste is not practical but rather “merely contemplative” (Kant 1790, 95).

By thus re-orienting the notion of disinterest, Kant brought the concept of taste into opposition with the concept of morality, and so into line, more or less, with the present concept of the aesthetic. But if the Kantian concept of taste is continuous, more or less, with the present-day concept of the aesthetic, why the terminological discontinuity? Why have we come to prefer the term “aesthetic” to the term “taste”? The not very interesting answer appears to be that we have preferred an adjective to a noun. The term “aesthetic” derives from the Greek term for sensory perception, and so preserves the implication of immediacy carried by the term “taste.” Kant employed both terms, though not equivalently: according to his usage, “aesthetic” is broader, picking out a class of judgments that includes both the normative judgment of taste and the non-normative, though equally immediate, judgment of the agreeable. Though Kant was not the first modern to use “aesthetic” (Baumgarten had used it as early as 1735), the term became widespread only, though quickly, after his employment of it in the third Critique. Yet the employment that became widespread was not exactly Kant's, but a narrower one according to which “aesthetic” simply functions as an adjective corresponding to the noun “taste.” So for example we find Coleridge, in 1821, expressing the wish that he “could find a more familiar word than aesthetic for works of taste and criticism,” before going on to argue:

As our language … contains no other useable adjective, to express coincidence of form, feeling, and intellect, that something, which, confirming the inner and the outward senses, becomes a new sense in itself … there is reason to hope, that the term aesthetic, will be brought into common use. (Coleridge 1821, 254)

The availability of an adjective corresponding to “taste” has allowed for the retiring of a series of awkward expressions: the expressions “judgment of taste,” “emotion of taste” and “quality of taste” have given way to the arguably less offensive “aesthetic judgment,” “aesthetic emotion,” and “aesthetic quality.” However, as the noun “taste” phased out, we became saddled with other perhaps equally awkward expressions, including the one that names this entry.

2. The Concept of the Aesthetic

Much of the history of more recent thinking about the concept of the aesthetic can be seen as the history of the development of the immediacy and disinterest theses.

2.1 Aesthetic Objects

Artistic formalism is the view that the artistically relevant properties of an artwork—the properties in virtue of which it is an artwork and in virtue of which it is a good or bad one—are formal merely, where formal properties are typically regarded as properties graspable by sight or by hearing merely. Artistic formalism has been taken to follow from both the immediacy and the disinterest theses (Binkley 1970, 266–267; Carroll 2001, 20–40). If you take the immediacy thesis to imply the artistic irrelevance of all properties whose grasping requires the use of reason, and you include representational properties in that class, then you are apt to think that the immediacy thesis implies artistic formalism. If you take the disinterest thesis to imply the artistic irrelevance of all properties capable of practical import, and you include representational properties in that class, then you are apt to think that the disinterest thesis implies artistic formalism.

This is not to suggest that the popularity enjoyed by artistic formalism during the late Nineteenth and early Twentieth Centuries owed mainly to its inference from the immediacy or disinterest theses. The most influential advocates of formalism during this period were professional critics, and their formalism derived, at least in part, from the artistic developments with which they were concerned. As a critic Eduard Hanslick advocated for the pure music of Mozart, Beethoven, Schumann, and later Brahms, and against the dramatically impure music of Wagner; as a theorist he urged that music has no content but “tonally moving forms” (Hanslick 1986, 29). As a critic Clive Bell was an early champion of the post-Impressionists, especially Cezanne; as a theorist he maintained that the formal properties of painting—“relations and combinations of lines and colours”—alone have artistic relevance (Bell 1958, 17–18). As a critic Clement Greenberg was abstract expressionism's ablest defender; as a theorist he held painting's “proper area of competence” to be exhausted by flatness, pigment, and shape (Greenberg 1986, 86–87).

Not every influential defender of formalism has also been a professional critic. Monroe Beardsley, who arguably gave formalism its most sophisticated articulation, was not (Beardsley 1958). Nor is Nick Zangwill, who recently has mounted a spirited and resourceful defense of a moderate version of formalism (Zangwill 2001). But formalism has always been sufficiently motivated by art-critical data that once Arthur Danto made the case that the data no longer supported it, and perhaps never really had, formalism's heyday came to an end. Inspired in particular by Warhol's Brillo Boxes, which are (more or less) perceptually indistinguishable from the brand-printed cartons in which boxes of Brillo were delivered to supermarkets, Danto observed that for most any artwork it is possible to imagine both (a) another object that is perceptually indiscernible from it but which is not an artwork, and (b) another artwork that is perceptually indiscernible from it but which differs in artistic value. From these observations he concluded that form alone neither makes an artwork nor gives it whatever value it has (Danto 1981, 94–95; Danto 1986, 30–31; Danto 1997, 91).

But Danto has taken the possibility of such perceptual indiscernibles to show the limitations not merely of form but also of aesthetics, and he has done so on the grounds, apparently, that the formal and the aesthetic are co-extensive. Regarding the Brillo boxes that Warhol exhibited in 1964 and those delivered to markets he maintains that

aesthetics could not explain why one was a work of fine art and the other not, since for all practical purposes they were aesthetically indiscernible: if one was beautiful, the other one had to be beautiful, since they looked just alike. (Danto 2003, 7)

But the inference from the limits of the artistically formal to the limits of the artistically aesthetic is presumably only as strong as the inferences from the immediacy and disinterest theses to artistic formalism, and these are not beyond question. The inference from the disinterest thesis appears to go through only if you employ a stronger notion of disinterest than the one Kant understands himself to be employing: Kant, it is worth recalling, regards poetry as the highest of the fine arts precisely because of its capacity to employ representational content in the expression of what he calls “aesthetic ideas” (Kant 1790, 191–194; see Costello 2008 and 2013 for extended treatment of the capacity of Kantian aesthetics to accommodate conceptual art). The inference from the immediacy thesis appears to go through only if you employ a notion of immediacy stronger than the one Hume, for example, takes himself to be defending when he claims (in a passage quoted in section1.1) that “in many orders of beauty, particularly those of the fine arts, it is requisite to employ much reasoning, in order to feel the proper sentiment” (Hume 1751, 173). It may be that artistic formalism results if you push either of the tendencies embodied in the immediacy and disinterest theses to extremes. It may be that the history of aesthetics from the Eighteenth Century to the mid-Twentieth is largely the history of pushing those two tendencies to extremes. It does not follow that those tendencies must be so pushed.

Consider Warhol's Brillo Boxes. Danto is right to maintain that the eighteenth-century theorist of taste would not know how to regard it as an artwork. But this is because the eighteenth-century theorist of taste lives in the Eighteenth Century, and so would be unable to situate that work in its twentieth-century art-historical context, and not because the kind of theory he holds forbids him from situating a work in its art-historical context. When Hume, for instance, observes that artists address their works to particular, historically-situated audiences, and that a critic therefore “must place himself in the same situation as the audience” to whom a work is addressed (Hume 1757, 239), he is allowing that artworks are cultural products, and that the properties that works have as the cultural products they are are among the “ingredients of the composition” that a critic must grasp if she is to feel the proper sentiment. Nor does there seem to be anything in the celebrated conceptuality of Brillo Boxes, nor of any other conceptual work, that ought to give the eighteenth-century theorist pause. Francis Hutcheson asserts that mathematical and scientific theorems are objects of taste (Hutcheson 1725, 36–41). Alexander Gerard asserts that scientific discoveries and philosophical theories are objects of taste (Gerard 1757, 6). Neither argues for his assertion. Both regard it as commonplace that objects of intellect may be objects of taste as readily as objects of sight and hearing may be. Why should the present-day aesthetic theorist think otherwise? If an object is conceptual in nature, grasping its nature will require intellectual work. If grasping an object's conceptual nature requires situating it art-historically, then the intellectual work required to grasp its nature will include situating it art-historically. But—as Hume and Reid held (see section 1.1)—grasping the nature of an object preparatory to aesthetically judging it is one thing; aesthetically judging the object once grasped is another.

Though Danto has been the most influential and persistent critic of formalism, his criticisms are no more decisive than those advanced by Kendall Walton in his essay “Categories of Art.” Walton's anti-formalist argument hinges on two main theses, one psychological and one philosophical. According to the psychological thesis, which aesthetic properties we perceive a work as having depends on which category we perceive the work as belonging to. Perceived as belonging to the category of painting, Picasso's Guernica will be perceived as “violent, dynamic, vital, disturbing” (Walton 1970, 347). But perceived as belonging to the category of “guernicas”—where guernicas are works with “surfaces with the colors and shapes of Picasso's Guernica, but the surfaces are molded to protrude from the wall like relief maps of different kinds of terrain”—Picasso's Guernica will be perceived not as violent and dynamic, but as “cold, stark, lifeless, or serene and restful, or perhaps bland, dull, boring” (Walton 1970, 347). That Picasso's Guernica can be perceived both as violent and dynamic and as not violent and not dynamic might be thought to imply that there is no fact of the matter whether it is violent and dynamic. But this implication holds only on the assumption that there is no fact of the matter which category Picasso's Guernica actually belongs to, and this assumption appears to be false given that Picasso intended that Guernica be a painting and did not intend that it be a Guernica, and that the category of paintings was well-established in the society in which Picasso painted it while the category of guernicas was not. Hence the philosophical thesis, according to which the aesthetic properties a work actually has are those it is perceived as having when perceived as belonging to the category (or categories) it actually belongs to. Since the properties of having been intended to be a painting and having been created in a society in which painting is well-established category are artistically relevant though not graspable merely by seeing (or hearing) the work, it seems that artistic formalism cannot be true. “I do not deny,” Walton concludes, “that paintings and sonatas are to be judged solely on what can be seen or heard in them—when they are perceived correctly. But examining a work with the senses can by itself reveal neither how it is correct to perceive it, nor how to perceive it that way” (Walton 1970, 367).

But if we cannot judge which aesthetic properties paintings and sonatas have without consulting the intentions and the societies of the artists who created them, what of the aesthetic properties of natural items? With respect to them it may appear as if there is nothing to consult except the way they look and sound, so that an aesthetic formalism about nature must be true. Allen Carlson, a central figure in the burgeoning field of the aesthetics of nature, argues against this appearance. Carlson observes that Walton's psychological thesis readily transfers from works of art to natural items: that we perceive Shetland ponies as cute and charming and Clydesdales as lumbering surely owes to our perceiving them as belonging to the category of horses (Carlson 1981, 19). He also maintains that the philosophical thesis transfers: whales actually have the aesthetic properties we perceive them as having when we perceive them as mammals, and do not actually have any contrasting aesthetic properties we might perceive them to have when we perceive them as fish. If we ask what determines which category or categories natural items actually belong to, the answer, according to Carlson, is their natural histories as discovered by natural science (Carlson 1981, 21–22). Inasmuch as a natural item's natural history will tend not to be graspable by merely seeing or hearing it, formalism is no truer of natural items than it is of works of art.

The claim that Walton's psychological thesis transfers to natural items has been widely accepted (and was in fact anticipated, as Carlson acknowledges, by Ronald Hepburn (Hepburn 1966 and 1968)). The claim that Walton's philosophical thesis transfers to natural items has proven more controversial. Carlson is surely right that aesthetic judgments about natural items are prone to be mistaken insofar as they result from perceptions of those items as belonging to categories to which they do not belong, and, insofar as determining which categories natural items actually belong to requires scientific investigation, this point seems sufficient to undercut the plausibility of any very strong formalism about nature (see Carlson 1979 for independent objections against such formalism). Carlson, however, also wishes to establish that aesthetic judgments about natural items have whatever objectivity aesthetic judgments about works of art do, and it is controversial whether Walton's philosophical claim transfers sufficiently to support such a claim. One difficulty, raised by Malcolm Budd (Budd 2002 and 2003) and Robert Stecker (Stecker1997c), is that since there are many categories in which a given natural item may correctly be perceived, it is unclear which correct category is the one in which the item is perceived as having the aesthetic properties it actually has. Perceived as belonging to the category of Shetland ponies, a large Shetland pony may be perceived as lumbering; perceived as belonging to the category of horses, the same pony may be perceived as cute and charming but certainly not lumbering. If the Shetland pony were a work of art, we might appeal to the intentions (or society) of its creator to determine which correct category is the one that fixes its aesthetic character. But as natural items are not human creations they can give us no basis for deciding between equally correct but aesthetically contrasting categorizations. It follows, according to Budd, “the aesthetic appreciation of nature is endowed with a freedom denied to the appreciation of art” (Budd 2003, 34), though this is perhaps merely another way of saying that the aesthetic appreciation of art is endowed with an objectivity denied to the appreciation of nature.

2.2 Aesthetic Judgment

The eighteenth-century debate between rationalists and theorists of taste (or sentimentalists) was primarily a debate over the immediacy thesis, i.e., over whether we judge objects to be beautiful by applying principles of beauty to them. It was not primarily a debate over the existence of principles of beauty, a matter over which theorists of taste might disagree. Kant denied that there are any such principles (Kant 1790, 101), but both Hutcheson and Hume affirmed their existence: they maintained that although judgments of beauty are judgments of taste and not of reason, taste nevertheless operates according to general principles, which might be discovered through empirical investigation (Hutcheson 1725, 28–35; Hume 1757, 231–233).

It is tempting to think of recent debate in aesthetics between particularists and generalists as a revival of the eighteenth-century debate between rationalists and theorists of taste. But the accuracy of this thought is difficult to gauge. One reason is that it is often unclear whether particularists and generalists take themselves merely to be debating the existence of aesthetic principles or to be debating their employment in aesthetic judgment. Another is that, to the degree particularists and generalists take themselves to be debating the employment of aesthetic principles in aesthetic judgment, it is hard to know what they can be meaning by “aesthetic judgment.” If “aesthetic” still carries its eighteenth-century implication of immediacy, then the question under debate is whether judgment that is immediate is immediate. If “aesthetic” no longer carries that implication, then it is hard to know what question is under debate because it is hard to know what aesthetic judgment could be. It may be tempting to think that we can simply re-define “aesthetic judgment” such that it refers to any judgment in which an aesthetic property is predicated of an object. But this requires being able to say what an aesthetic property is without reference to its being immediately graspable, something no one seems to have done. It may seem that we can simply re-define “aesthetic judgment” such that it refers to any judgment in which any property of the class exemplified by beauty is predicated of an object. But which class is this? The classes exemplified by beauty are presumably endless, and the difficulty is to specify the relevant class without reference to the immediate graspability of its members, and that is what no one seems to have done.

However we are to sort out the particularist/genealist debate, important contributions to it include, on the side of particularism, Arnold Isenberg's “Critical Communication” (1949) Frank Sibley's “Aesthetic Concepts” (in Sibley 2001) and Mary Mothersill's Beauty Restored (1984) and, on the side of generalism, Monroe Beardsley's Aesthetics (1958) and “On the Generality of Critical Reasons” (1962), Sibley's “General Reasons and Criteria in Aesthetics” (in Sibley 2001), George Dickie's Evaluating Art (1987) and John Bender's “General but Defeasible Reasons in Aesthetic Evaluation: The Generalist/Particularist Dispute” (1995). Of these, the papers by Isenberg and Sibley have arguably enjoyed the greatest influence.

Isenberg concedes that we often appeal to descriptive features of works in support of our judgments of their value, and he allows that this may make it seem as if we must be appealing to principles in making those judgments. If in support of a favorable judgment of some painting a critic appeals to the wavelike contour formed by the figures clustered in its foreground, it may seem as if his judgment must involve tacit appeal to the principle that any painting having such a contour is so much the better. But Isenberg argues that this cannot be, since no one agrees to any such principle:

There is not in all the world's criticism a single purely descriptive statement concerning which one is prepared to say beforehand, ‘If it is true, I shall like that work so much the better’ (Isenberg 1949, 338).

But if in appealing to the descriptive features of a work we are not acknowledging tacit appeal to principles linking those features to aesthetic value, what are we doing? Isenberg believes we are offering “directions for perceiving” the work, i.e., by singling out certain its features, we “narrow[ing] down the field of possible visual orientations” and thereby guiding others in “the discrimination of details, the organization of parts, the grouping of discrete objects into patterns” (Isenberg 1949, 336). In this way we get others to see what we have seen, rather than getting them to infer from principle what we have so inferred.

That Sibley advances a variety of particularism in one paper and a variety of generalism in another will give the appearance of inconsistency where there is none: Sibley is a particularist of one sort, and with respect to one distinction, and a generalist of another sort with respect to another distinction. Isenberg, as noted, is a particularist with respect to the distinction between descriptions and verdicts, i.e., he maintains that there are no principles by which we may infer from value-neutral descriptions of works to judgments of their overall value. Sibley's particularism and generalism, by contrast, both have to do with judgments falling in between descriptions and verdicts. With respect to a distinction between descriptions and a set of judgments intermediate between descriptions and verdicts, Sibley is straightforwardly particularist. With respect to a distinction between a set of judgments intermediate between descriptions and verdicts and verdicts, Sibley is a kind of generalist and describes himself as such.

Sibley's generalism, as set forth in “General Reasons and Criteria in Aesthetics,” begins with the observation that the properties to which we appeal in justification of favorable verdicts are not all descriptive or value-neutral. We also appeal to properties that are inherently positive, such as grace, or balance, or dramatic intensity, or comicality. To say that a property is inherently positive is not to say that any work having it is so much the better, but rather that its tout court attribution implies value. So although a work may be made worse on account of its comical elements, the simple claim that a work is good because comical is intelligible in a way that the simple claims that a work is good because yellow, or because it lasts twelve minutes, or because it contains many puns, are not. But if the simple claim that a work is good because comical is thus intelligible, comicality is a general criterion for aesthetic value, and the principle that articulates that generality is true. But none of this casts any doubt on the immediacy thesis, as Sibley himself observes:

I have argued elsewhere that there are no sure-fire rules by which, referring to the neutral and non-aesthetic qualities of things, one can infer that something is balanced, tragic, comic, joyous, and so on. One has to look and see. Here, equally, at a different level, I am saying that there are no sure-fire mechanical rules or procedures for deciding which qualities are actual defects in the work; one has to judge for oneself. (Sibley 2001, 107–108)

The “elsewhere” referred to in the first sentence is Sibley's earlier paper, “Aesthetic Concepts,” which argues that the application of concepts such as “balanced,” “tragic,” “comic,” “joyous” is not a matter of determining whether the descriptive (i.e., non-aesthetic) conditions for their application are met, but is rather a matter of taste. Hence aesthetic judgments are immediate in something like the way that judgments of color, or of flavor, are:

We see that a book is red by looking, just as we tell that the tea is sweet by tasting it. So too, it might be said, we just see (or fail to see) that things are delicate, balanced, and the like. This kind of comparison between the exercise of taste and the use of the five senses is indeed familiar; our use of the word ‘taste’ itself shows that the comparison is age-old and very natural (Sibley 2001, 13–14).

But Sibley recognizes—as his eighteenth-century forebears did and his formalist contemporaries did not—that important differences remain between the exercise of taste and the use of the five senses. Central among these is that we offer reasons, or something like them, in support of our aesthetic judgments: by talking—in particular, by appealing to the descriptive properties on which the aesthetic properties depend—we justify aesthetic judgments by bringing others to see what we have seen (Sibley 2001, 14–19).

It is unclear to what degree Sibley, beyond seeking to establish that the application of aesthetic concepts is not condition-governed, seeks also to define the term “aesthetic” in terms of their not being so. It is clearer, perhaps, that he does not succeed in defining the term this way, whatever his intentions. Aesthetic concepts are not alone in being non-condition-governed, as Sibley himself recognizes in comparing them with color concepts. But there is also no reason to think them alone in being non-condition-governed while also being reason-supportable, since moral concepts, to give one example, at least arguably also have both these features. Isolating the aesthetic requires something more than immediacy, as Kant saw. It requires something like the Kantian notion of disinterest, or at least something to play the role played by that notion in Kant's theory.

2.3 The Aesthetic Attitude

The Kantian notion of disinterest has its most direct recent descendents in the aesthetic-attitude theories that flourished from the early to mid Twentieth Century. Though Kant followed the British in applying the term “disinterested” strictly to pleasures, its migration to attitudes is not difficult to explain. For Kant the pleasure involved in a judgment of taste is disinterested because such a judgment does not issue in a motive to do anything in particular. For this reason Kant refers to the judgment of taste as contemplative rather than practical (Kant 1790, 95). But if the judgment of taste is not practical, then the attitude we bear toward its object is presumably also not practical: when we judge an object aesthetically we are unconcerned with whether and how it may further our practical aims. Hence it is natural to speak of our attitude toward the object as disinterested.

To say, however, that the migration of disinterest from pleasures to attitudes is natural is not to say that it is inconsequential. Consider the difference between Kant's aesthetic theory, the last great theory of taste, and Schopenhauer's aesthetic theory, the first great aesthetic-attitude theory. Whereas for Kant disinterested pleasure is the means by which we discover things to bear aesthetic value, for Schopenhauer disinterested attention (or "will-less contemplation") is itself the locus of aesthetic value. According to Schopenhauer, we lead our ordinary, practical lives in a kind of bondage to our own desires (Schopenhauer 1819, 196). This bondage is a source not merely of pain but also of cognitive distortion in that it restricts our attention to those aspects of things relevant to the fulfilling or thwarting of our desires. Aesthetic contemplation, being will-less, is therefore both epistemically and hedonically valuable, allowing us a desire-free glimpse into the essences of things as well as a respite from desire-induced pain:

When, however, an external cause or inward disposition suddenly raises us out of the endless stream of willing, and snatches knowledge from the thralldom of the will, the attention is now no longer directed to the motives of willing, but comprehends things free from their relation to the will ... Then all at once the peace, always sought but always escaping us ... comes to us of its own accord, and all is well with us. (Schopenhauer 1819, 196)

The two most influential aesthetic-attitude theories of the Twentieth Century are those of Edward Bullough and Jerome Stolnitz. According to Stolnitz's theory, which is the more straightforward of the two, bearing an aesthetic attitude toward an object is a matter of attending to it disinterestedly and sympathetically, where to attend to it disinterestedly is to attend to it with no purpose beyond that of attending to it, and to attend to it sympathetically is to “accept it on its own terms,” allowing it, and not one's own preconceptions, to guide one's attention of it (Stolnitz 1960, 32–36). The result of such attention is a comparatively richer experience of the object, i.e., an experience taking in comparatively many of the object's features. Whereas a practical attitude limits and fragments the object of our experience, allowing us to “see only those of its features which are relevant to our purposes,” the aesthetic attitude, by contrast, ‘isolates’ the object and focuses upon it—the ‘look’ of the rocks, the sound of the ocean, the colors in the painting.” (Stolnitz 1960, 35).

Bullough, who prefers to speak of “psychical distance” rather than disinterest, characterizes aesthetic appreciation as something achieved

by putting the phenomenon, so to speak, out of gear with our actual practical self; by allowing it to stand outside the context of our personal needs and ends—in short, by looking at it ‘objectively’ … by permitting only such reactions on our part as emphasise the ‘objective features of the experience, and by interpreting even our ‘subjective’ affections not as modes of our being but rather as characteristics of the phenomenon. (Bullough 1995, 298–299; emphasis in original).

Bullough has been criticized for claiming that aesthetic appreciation requires dispassionate detachment:

Bullough's characterization of the aesthetic attitude is the easiest to attack. When we cry at a tragedy, jump in fear at a horror movie, or lose ourselves in the plot of a complex novel, we cannot be said to be detached, although we may be appreciating the aesthetic qualities of these works to the fullest… . And we can appreciate the aesthetic properties of the fog or storm while fearing the dangers they present. (Goldman 2005, 264)

But such a criticism seems to overlook a subtlety of Bullough's view. While Bullough does hold that aesthetic appreciation requires distance “between our own self and its affections” (Bullough 1995, 298), he does not take this to require that we not undergo affections but quite the opposite: only if we undergo affections have we affections from which to be distanced. So, for example, the properly distanced spectator of a well-constructed tragedy is not the “over-distanced” spectator who feels no pity or fear, nor the “under-distanced” spectator who feels pity and fear as she would to an actual, present catastrophe, but the spectator who interprets the pity and fear she feels “not as modes of [her] being but rather as characteristics of the phenomenon” (Bullough 1995, 299). The properly distanced spectator of a tragedy, we might say, understands her fear and pity to be part of what tragedy is about.

The notion of the aesthetic attitude has been attacked from all corners and has very few remaining sympathizers. George Dickie is widely regarded as having delivered the decisive blow in his essay “The Myth of the Aesthetic Attitude” (Dickie 1964) by arguing that all purported examples of interested or distanced attention are really just examples of inattention. So consider the case of the spectator at a performance of Othello who becomes increasingly suspicious of his wife as the action proceeds, or the case of the impresario who sits gauging the size of the audience, or the case of the father who sits taking pride in his daughter's performance, or the case of the moralist who sits gauging the moral effects the play is apt to produce in its audience. These and all such cases will be regarded by the attitude theorist as cases of interested or distanced attention to the performance, when they are actually nothing but cases of inattention to the performance: the jealous husband is attending to his wife, the impresario to the till, the father to his daughter, the moralist to the effects of the play. But if none of them is attending to the performance, then none of them is attending to it disinterestedly or with distance (Dickie 1964, 57–59).

The attitude theorist, however, can plausibly resist Dickie's interpretation of such examples. Clearly the impresario is not attending to the performance, but there is no reason to regard the attitude theorist as committed to thinking otherwise. As for the others, it might be argued that they are all attending. The jealous husband must be attending to the performance, since it is the action of the play, as presented by the performance, that is making him suspicious. The proud father must be attending to the performance, since he is attending to his daughter's performance, which is an element of it. The moralist must be attending to the performance, since he otherwise would have no basis by which to gauge its moral effects on the audience. It may be that none of these spectators is giving the performance the attention it demands, but that is precisely the attitude theorist's point.

But perhaps another of Dickie's criticisms, one lesser known, ultimately poses a greater threat to the ambitions of the attitude theorist. Stolnitz, it will be recalled, distinguishes between disinterested and interested attention according to the purpose governing the attention: to attend disinterestedly is to attend with no purpose beyond that of attending; to attend interestedly is to attend with some purpose beyond that of attending. But Dickie objects that a difference in purpose does not imply a difference in attention:

Suppose Jones listens to a piece of music for the purpose of being able to analyze and describe it on an examination the next day and Smith listens to the same music with no such ulterior purpose. There is certainly a difference in the motives and intentions of the two men: Jones has an ulterior purpose and Smith does not, but this does not mean Jones's listening differs from Smith's… . There is only one way to listen to (to attend to) music, although there may be a variety of motives, intentions, and reasons for doing so and a variety of ways of being distracted from the music. (Dickie 1964, 58).

There is again much here that the attitude theorist can resist. The idea that listening is a species of attending can be resisted: the question at hand, strictly speaking, is not whether Jones and Smith listen to the music in the same way, but whether they attend in the same way to the music they are listening to. The contention that Jones and Smith are attending in the same way appears to be question-begging, as it evidently depends on a principle of individuation that the attitude theorist rejects: if Jones's attention is governed by some ulterior purpose and Smith's is not, and we individuate attention according to the purpose that governs it, their attention is not the same. Finally, even if we reject the attitude theorist's principle of individuation, the claim that there is but one way to attend to music is doubtful: one can seemingly attend to music in myriad ways—as historical document, as cultural artifact, as aural wallpaper, as sonic disturbance—depending on which of the music's features one attends to in listening to it. But Dickie is nevertheless onto something crucial to the degree he urges that a difference in purpose need not imply a relevant difference in attention. Disinterest plausibly figures in the definition of the aesthetic attitude only to the degree that it, and it alone, focuses attention on the features of the object that matter aesthetically. The possibility that there are interests that focus attention on just those same features implies that disinterest has no place in such a definition, which in turn implies that neither it nor the notion of the aesthetic attitude is likely to be of any use in fixing the meaning of the term “aesthetic.” If to take the aesthetic attitude toward an object simply is to attend to its aesthetically relevant properties, whether the attention is interested or disinterested, then determining whether an attitude is aesthetic apparently requires first determining which properties are the aesthetically relevant ones. And this task seems always to result either in claims about the immediate graspability of aesthetic properties, which are arguably insufficient to the task, or in claims about the essentially formal nature of aesthetic properties, which are arguably groundless.

But that the notions of disinterest and psychical distance prove unhelpful in fixing the meaning of the term “aesthetic” does not imply that they are mythic. At times we seem unable to get by without them. Consider the case of The Fall of Miletus—a tragedy written by the Greek dramatist Phrynicus and staged in Athens barely two years after the violent Persian capture of the Greek city of Miletus in 494 BC. Herodotus records that

[the Athenians] found many ways to express their sorrow at the fall of Miletus, and in particular, when Phrynicus composed and produced a play called The Fall of Miletus, the audience burst into tears and fined him a thousand drachmas for reminding them of a disaster that was so close to home; future productions of the play were also banned. (Herodotus, The Histories, 359)

How are we to explain the Athenian reaction to this play without recourse to something like interest or lack of distance? How, in particular, are we to explain the difference between the sorrow elicited by a successful tragedy and the sorrow elicited in this case? The distinction between attention and inattention is of no use here. The difference is not that the Athenians could not attend to The Fall whereas they could attend to other plays. The difference is that they could not attend to The Fall as they could attend to other plays, and this because of their too intimate connection to what attending to The Fall required their attending to.

2.4 Aesthetic Experience

Theories of aesthetic experience may be divided into two kinds according to the kind of feature appealed to in explanation of what makes experience aesthetic. Internalist theories appeal to features internal to experience, typically to phenomenological features, whereas externalist theories appeal to features external to the experience, typically to features of the object experienced. (The distinction between internalist and externalist theories of aesthetic experience is similar, though not identical, to the distinction between phenomenal and epistemic conceptions of aesthetic experience drawn by Gary Iseminger (Iseminger 2003, 100, and Iseminger 2004, 27, 36)). Though internalist theories—particularly John Dewey's (1934) and Monroe Beardsley's (1958)—predominated during the early and middle parts of the Twentieth Century, externalist theories—including Beardsley's (1982) and George Dickie's (1988)—have been in the ascendant since. Beardsley's views on aesthetic experience make a strong claim on our attention, given that Beardsley might be said to have authored the culminating internalist theory as well as the founding externalist one. Dickie's criticisms of Beardsley's internalism make an equally strong claim, since they moved Beardsley—and with him most everyone else—from internalism toward externalism.

According to the version of internalism Beardsley advances in his Aesthetics (1958), all aesthetic experiences have in common three or four (depending on how you count) features, which “some writers have [discovered] through acute introspection, and which each of us can test in his own experience” (Beardsley 1958, 527). These are focus (“an aesthetic experience is one in which attention is firmly fixed upon [its object]”), intensity, and unity, where unity is a matter of coherence and of completeness (Beardsley 1958, 527). Coherence, in turn, is a matter of having elements that are properly connected one to another such that

[o]ne thing leads to another; continuity of development, without gaps or dead spaces, a sense of overall providential pattern of guidance, an orderly cumulation of energy toward a climax, are present to an unusual degree. (Beardsley 1958, 528)

Completeness, by contrast, is a matter having elements that “counterbalance” or “resolve” one another such that the whole stands apart from elements without it:

The impulses and expectations aroused by elements within the experience are felt to be counterbalanced or resolved by other elements within the experience, so that some degree of equilibrium or finality is achieved and enjoyed. The experience detaches itself, and even insulates itself, from the intrusion of alien elements. (Beardsley 1958, 528)

Dickie's most consequential criticism of Beardsley's theory is that Beardsley, in describing the phenomenology of aesthetic experience, has failed to distinguish between the features we experience aesthetic objects as having and the features aesthetic experiences themselves have. So while every feature mentioned in Beardsley's description of the coherence of aesthetic experience—continuity of development, the absence of gaps, the mounting of energy toward a climax—surely is a feature we experience aesthetic objects as having, there is no reason to think of aesthetic experience itself as having any such features:

Note that everything referred to [in Beardsley's description of coherence] is a perceptual characteristic … and not an effect of perceptual characteristics. Thus, no ground is furnished for concluding that experience can be unified in the sense of being coherent. What is actually argued for is that aesthetic objects are coherent, a conclusion which must be granted, but not the one which is relevant. (Dickie 1965, 131)

Dickie raises a similar worry about Beardsley's description of the completeness of aesthetic experience:

One can speak of elements being counterbalanced in the painting and say that the painting is stable, balanced and so on, but what does it mean to say the experience of the spectator of the painting is stable or balanced? … Looking at a painting in some cases might aid some persons in coming to feel stable because it might distract them from whatever is unsettling them, but such cases are atypical of aesthetic appreciation and not relevant to aesthetic theory. Aren't characteristics attributable to the painting simply being mistakenly shifted to the spectator? (Dickie 1965, 132)

Though these objections turned out to be only the beginning of the debate between Dickie and Beardsley on the nature of aesthetic experience (See Beardsley 1969, Dickie 1974, Beardsley 1982, and Dickie 1987; see also Iseminger 2003 for a helpful overview of the Beardsley-Dickie debate), they nevertheless went a long way toward shaping that debate, which taken as whole might be seen as the working out of an answer to the question “What can a theory of aesthetic experience be that takes seriously the distinction between the experience of features and the features of experience?” The answer turned out to be an externalist theory of the sort that Beardsley advances in the 1982 essay “The Aesthetic Point of View” and that many others have advanced since: a theory according to which an aesthetic experience just is an experience having aesthetic content, i.e., an experience of an object as having the aesthetic features that it has.

The shift from internalism to externalism has not been without costs. One central ambition of internalism—that of fixing the meaning of “aesthetic” by tying it to features peculiar to aesthetic experience—has had to be given up. But a second, equally central, ambition—that of accounting for aesthetic value by tying it to the value of aesthetic experience—has been retained. Indeed most everything written on aesthetic experience since the Beardsley-Dickie debate has been written in service of the view that an object has aesthetic value insofar as it affords valuable experience when correctly perceived. This view—which has come to be called empiricism about aesthetic value, given that it reduces aesthetic value to the value of aesthetic experience—has attracted many advocates over the last several years (Beardsley 1982, Budd 1985 and 1995, Goldman 1995 and 2006, Walton 1993, Levinson 1996 and 2006, Miller 1998, Railton 1998, and Iseminger 2004), while provoking relatively little criticism (Zangwill 1999, Sharpe 2000, D. Davies 2004, and Kieran 2005). Yet it can be wondered whether empiricism about aesthetic value is susceptible to a version of the criticism that has done internalism in.

For there is something odd about the position that combines externalism about aesthetic experience with empiricism about aesthetic value. Externalism locates the features that determine aesthetic character in the object, whereas empiricism locates the features that determine aesthetic value in the experience, when one might have thought that the features that determine aesthetic character just are the features that determine aesthetic value. If externalism and empiricism are both true, there is nothing to stop two objects that have different, even wholly disparate, aesthetic characters from nevertheless having the very same aesthetic value—unless, that is, the value-determining features of an experience are bound logically to the character-determining features of the object that affords it such that only an object with those features could afford an experience having that value. But in that case the value-determining features of the experience are evidently not simply the phenomenological features that might have seemed best suited to determine the value of the experience, but perhaps rather the representational or epistemic features of the experience that it has only in relation to its object. And this is what some empiricists have been urging of late:

Aesthetic experience … aims first at understanding and appreciation, at taking in the aesthetic properties of the object. The object itself is valuable for providing experience that could only be an experience of that object… . Part of the value of aesthetic experience lies in experiencing the object in the right way, in a way true to its nonaesthetic properties, so that the aim of understanding and appreciation is fulfilled. (Goldman 2006, 339–341; see also Iseminger 2004, 36)

But there is an unaddressed difficulty with this line of thought. While the representational or epistemic features of an aesthetic experience might very plausibly contribute to its value, such features very implausibly contribute to the value of the object affording such an experience. If the value of the experience of a good poem consists, in part, in its being an experience in which the poem is properly understood or accurately represented, the value of a good poem cannot consist, even in part, in its capacity to afford an experience in which it is properly understood or accurately represented, because, all things being equal, a bad poem presumably has these capacities in equal measure. It is of course true that only a good poem rewards an understanding of it. But then a good poem's capacity for rewarding understanding is evidently to be explained by the poem's already being good; it is evidently in virtue of its already being good that a poem rewards us on condition that we understand it.

Other empiricists have taken a different tack. Instead of trying to isolate the general features of aesthetic experience in virtue of which it and its objects are valuable, they simply observe the impossibility, in any particular case, of saying much about the value of an aesthetic experience without also saying a lot about the aesthetic character of the object. So, for example, referring to the values of the experiences that works of art afford, Jerrold Levinson maintains that

if we examine more closely these goods … we see that their most adequate description invariably reveals them to involve ineliminably the artworks that provide them… . The cognitive expansion afforded us by Bartok's Fourth String Quartet, similarly, is not so much a generalized effect of that sort as it is a specific state of stimulation undetachable from the particular turns and twists of Bartok's carefully crafted essay… . even the pleasure we take in the Allegro of Mozart's Symphony no. 29 is, as it were, the pleasure of discovering the individual nature and potential of its thematic material, and the precise way its aesthetic character emerges from its musical underpinnings… . there is a sense in which the pleasure of the Twenty-Ninth can be had only from that work. (Levinson 1996, 22–23; see also Budd 1985, 123–124)

There is no denying that when we attempt to describe, in any detail, the values of experiences afforded by particular works we quickly find ourselves describing the works themselves. The question is what to make of this fact. If one is antecedently committed to empiricism, it may seem a manifestation of the appropriately intimate connection between the aesthetic character of a work and the value of the experience that the work affords. But if one is not so committed, it may seem to manifest something else. If, when attempting to account for the aesthetic value of Bartok's Fourth String Quartet in terms of the value of the experience it affords, we find ourselves unable to say much about the value of that experience without saying something about the quartet's “particular turns and twists,” this may be because the value resides in those twists and turns and not in the experience of them. To affirm such a possibility, of course, is not to deny that the value the quartet has in virtue of its particular twists in turns is a value that we experience it as having. It is rather to insist on sharply distinguishing between the value of experience and the experience of value, in something like the way Dickie insisted on sharply distinguishing between the unity of experience and the experience of unity. When the empiricist maintains that that value of Bartok's Fourth String Quartet, with its particular twists and turns, consists in the value of the experience that it affords, which experience is valuable, at least in part, because it is an experience of a quartet with those twists and turns, one may wonder whether a value originally belonging to the quartet has been transferred to the experience, before being reflected back, once again, onto the quartet.

Bibliography

  • Beardsley, M.C., 1958, Aesthetics, Indianapolis: Hackett.
  • –––, 1962, “On the Generality of Critical Reasons,” The Journal of Philosophy, 59: 477–486.
  • –––, 1982, The Aesthetic Point of View, Ithaca, NY: Cornell University Press
  • Bell, C., 1958, Art, New York: Capricorn Books.
  • Bender, J., 1995, “General but Defeasible Reasons in Aesthetic Evaluation: The Generalist/Particularist Dispute,” The Journal of Aesthetics and Art Criticism, 53: 379–392.
  • Binkley, T., 1970, “Piece: Contra Aesthetics,” The Journal of Aesthetics and Art Criticism, 35: 265–277.
  • Budd, M., 1985, Music and the Emotions: The Philosophical Theories, London: Routledge.
  • –––, 1995, Values of Art: Painting, Poetry, and Music, London: Penguin.
  • –––, 2002, The Aesthetic Appreciation of Nature, Oxford: Oxford University Press.
  • –––, 2003, “Aesthetics of Nature,” in The Oxford Handbook of Aesthetics, J. Levinson (ed.), Oxford: Oxford University Press, 117–135.
  • –––, 2008, Aesthetic Essays, Oxford: Oxford University Press.
  • Bullough, E., 1995, “‘Psychical Distance’ as a Factor in Art and as an Aesthetic Principle,” in The Philosophy of Art: Readings Ancient and Modern, A. Neill and A. Ridley (eds.), New York: McGraw-Hill.
  • Carlson, A., 1979, “Formal Qualities in the Natural Environment,” Journal of Aesthetic Education, 13: 99–114.
  • –––, 1981, “Nature, Aesthetic Judgment, and Objectivity,” The Journal of Aesthetics and Art Criticism, 40: 15–27.
  • Carroll, N., 2000, “Art and the Domain of the Aesthetic,” The British Journal of Aesthetics, 40: 191–208.
  • –––, 2001, Beyond Aesthetics, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
  • Cohen, T., 1973, “Aesthetics/Non-Aesthetics and the Concept of Taste,” Theoria, 39: 113–52.
  • Coleridge, S., 1821, “Letter to Mr. Blackwood,” in Blackwood's Edinburgh Magazine, 10: 253–255.
  • Cooper, A., (Third Earl of Shaftesbury), 1711, Characteristics of Men, Manners, Opinions, Times, Indianapolis: Liberty Fund, 2001.
  • Costello, D., 2008, “Kant and Danto, Together at Last?,” in K. Stock and K. Thomson-Jones (eds.), New Waves in Aesthetics, Houndmills, Basingstoke, Hampshire: Palgrave MacMillan, 244–266.
  • –––, 2013, “Kant and the Problem of Strong Non-Perceptual Art,” The British Journal of Aesthetics, 53: 277–298.
  • Davies, D., 2004, Art as Performance, Oxford: Blackwell.
  • Davies, S., 2006, “Aesthetic Judgments, Artworks, and Functional Beauty,” Philosophical Quarterly, 56: 224–241.
  • Danto, A.C., 1981, The Transfiguration of the Commonplace, Cambridge, Mass.: Harvard University Press.
  • –––, 1986, The Philosophical Disenfranchisement of Art, New York: Columbia University Press.
  • –––, 1997, After the End of Art: Contemporary Art and the Pale of History, Princeton: Princeton University Press.
  • –––, 2003, The Abuse of Beauty, Peru, IL: Open Court.
  • Dewey, J., 1934, Art and Experience, New York: Putnam.
  • Dickie, G., 1964, “The Myth of the Aesthetic Attitude,” American Philosophical Quarterly, 1: 56–65.
  • –––, 1965, “Beardsley's Phantom Aesthetic Experience,” Journal of Philosophy, 62: 129–136.
  • –––, 1974, Art and the Aesthetic: An Institutional Analysis, Ithaca, NY: Cornell University Press.
  • –––, 1988, Evaluating Art, Philadelphia: Temple University Press.
  • –––, 1996, The Century of Taste, Oxford: Oxford University Press.
  • Dubos, J.-B. 1748, Critical Reflections on Poetry, Painting, and Music, T. Nugent (trans.), London.
  • Gerard, A., 1759, An Essay on Taste, London: Millar.
  • Goldman, A.H., 1990, “Aesthetic Qualities and Aesthetic Value,” Journal of Philosophy, 87: 23–37.
  • –––, 1995, Aesthetic Value, Boulder, CO: Westview.
  • –––, 2004, “Evaluating Art,” in P. Kivy (ed.), The Blackwell Guide to Aesthetics, Malden, MA: Blackwell, 93–108.
  • –––, 2005, “The Aesthetic,” in The Routledge Companion to Aesthetics, B. Gaut and D. Lopes (eds.), London: Routledge, 255–266.
  • –––, 2006, “The Experiential Account of Aesthetic Value,” The Journal of Aesthetics and Art Criticism, 64: 333–342.
  • Greenberg, C., 1986, The Collected Essays and Criticism, Chicago: University of Chicago Press.
  • Guyer, P., 1993, “The dialectic of disinterestedness: I. Eighteenth-century aesthetics”, in Kant and the Experience of Freedom: Essays on Aesthetics and Morality, New York: Cambridge University Press.
  • –––, 2004, “The Origins of Modern Aesthetics: 1711–1735” in The Blackwell Guide to Aesthetics, P. Kivy (ed.), Malden, MA: Blackwell Publishing.
  • Hanslick, E., 1986, On the Musically Beautiful, G. Payzant (trans.), Indianapolis: Hackett.
  • Hepburn, R.W., 1966, “Contemporary Aesthetics and the Neglect of Natural Beauty,” in British Analytical Philosophy, B. Williams and A. Montefiori (eds.), London: Routledge and Kegan Paul, 285–310.
  • –––, 1968, “Aesthetic Appreciation of Nature” in Aesthetics in the Modern World, H. Osborne (ed.), London: Thames and Hudson.
  • Herodotus, The Histories, R. Waterfield (trans.), Oxford: Oxford University Press, 1998.
  • Home, H. (Lord Kames), 2005, Elements of Criticism (Volume 1), Indianapolis: Liberty Fund.
  • Hopkins, R., 2000, “Beauty and Testimony” in Philosophy, the Good, the True and the Beautiful, A. O'Hear (ed.), Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 209–236.
  • –––, 2004, “Critical Reasoning and Critical Perception,” in Knowing Art, M. Kieran and D. Lopes (eds.), Dordrecht: Springer, 137–154.
  • –––, 2011, “How to Be a Pessimist about Aesthetic Testimony,” The Journal of Philosophy, 108: 138–157.
  • Hume, D., 1751, Enquiry Concerning the Principles of Morals, in L.A. Selby-Bigge and P. Nidditch (eds.), Enquiries Concerning Human Understanding and Concerning the Principles of Morals, Oxford: Oxford University Press, 1986.
  • –––, 1757, “Of the Standard of Taste,” in E. Miller (ed.), Essays Moral, Political, and Literary, Indianapolis: Liberty Fund, 1985.
  • Hutcheson, F., 1725, An Inquiry into the Origin of Our Ideas of Beauty and Virtue, W. Leidhold (ed.), Indianapolis: Liberty Fund, 2004.
  • Iseminger, G., 2003, “Aesthetic Experience,” in The Oxford Handbook of Aesthetics, J. Levinson (ed.), Oxford: Oxford University Press, 99–116.
  • –––, 2004, The Aesthetic Function of Art, Ithaca, N.Y.: Cornell University Press.
  • Isenberg, A., 1949, “Critical Communication,” Philosophical Review, 58(4): 330–344.
  • Kant, I., 1790, Critique of the Power of Judgment, trans. P. Guyer, and E. Matthews, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 2000.
  • Kemp, G., 1999, “The Aesthetic Attitude,” The British Journal of Aesthetics, 39: 392–399.
  • Kieran, M., 2005, Revealing Art, London: Routledge.
  • Kivy, P., 1973, Speaking of Art, The Hague: Martinus Nijhoff.
  • –––, 2003, The Seventh Sense: Francis Hutcheson and Eighteenth-Century British-Aesthetics, Oxford: Oxford University Press.
  • Levinson, J., 1996, The Pleasures of Aesthetics, Ithaca, NY: Cornell University Press.
  • –––, 2006, Contemplating Art: Essays in Aesthetics, Oxford: Oxford University Press.
  • Lopes, D., 2011, “The Myth of (Non-Aesthetic) Artistic Value,” The Philosophical Quarterly, 61: 518–536.
  • Miller, R., 1998, “Three Versions of Objectivity: Aesthetic, Moral, and Scientific,” in J. Levinson (ed.), Aesthetics and Ethics, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 26–58.
  • Mothersill, M., 1984, Beauty Restored, Oxford: Oxford Clarendon Press.
  • Railton, P., 1998, “Aesthetic Value, Moral Value, and the Ambitions of Naturalism,” in J. Levinson (ed.), Aesthetics and Ethics, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 59–105.
  • Reid, T., 1785, Essays on the Intellectual Powers of Man, Cambridge, MA: The M.I.T. Press, 1969.
  • Rind, M., 2002, “The Concept of Disinterestedness in Eighteenth-Century British Aesthetics,” The Journal of the History of Philosophy, 40: 67–87.
  • Schopenhauer, A., 1819, The World as Will and Representation, vol. 1, trans. E. Payne, New York: Dover, 1969.
  • Sharpe, R.A., 2000, “The Empiricist Theory of Artistic Value,” Journal of Aesthetics and Art Criticism, 58: 312–332.
  • Shelley, J., 2003, “The Problem of Non-Perceptual Art,” The British Journal of Aesthetics, 43: 363–378.
  • –––, 2004, “Critical Compatibilism,” in Knowing Art, D. Lopes and M. Kieran (eds.), Dordrecht: Springer, 125–136.
  • –––, 2007, “Aesthetics and the World at Large,” The British Journal of Aesthetics, 47: 169–183.
  • –––, 2010, “Against Value Empiricism in Aesthetics,” Australasian Journal of Philosophy, 88: 707–720.
  • Sibley, F., 2001, Approach to Aesthetics: Collected Papers on Philosophical Aesthetics, J. Benson, B. Redfern, and J. Cox (eds.), Oxford: Clarendon Press.
  • Stecker, R., 1997a, Artworks: Definition, Meaning, Value University Park: Pennsylvania State University Press.
  • –––, 1997b, “Two Conceptions of Artistic Value,” Iyyun, 46: 51–62.
  • –––, 1997c, “The Correct and the Appropriate in the Appreciation of Nature,” The British Journal of Aesthetics, 37: 393–402.
  • –––, 2004, “Value in Art,” in J. Levinson (ed.), The Oxford Handbook of Aesthetics, Oxford: Oxford University Press, 307–324.
  • Stolnitz, J., 1960, Aesthetics and Philosophy of Art Criticism, New York: Houghton Mifflin.
  • Terrasson, J., 1715, Dissertation Critique sur L'lliade d'Homère, Paris: Fournier and Coustelier.
  • Walton, K.L., 1970, “Categories of Art,” The Philosophical Review, 79 (3): 334–367.
  • –––, 1993, “How Marvelous!: Towards a Theory of Aesthetic Value,” Journal of Aesthetics and Art Criticism, 51: 499–510.
  • Wimsatt, W. and Brooks, C., 1957, Literary Criticism: A Short History, New York: Knopf.
  • Zangwill, N., 1999, “Art and Audience,” The Journal of Aesthetics and Art Criticism, 57: 315–332.
  • –––, 2001, The Metaphysics of Beauty, Ithaca, NY: Cornell University Press.
  • –––, 2007, Aesthetic Creation, Oxford: Oxford University Press.

Other Internet Resources

Copyright © 2013 by
James Shelley <shelljr@auburn.edu>

Open access to the SEP is made possible by a world-wide funding initiative.
Please Read How You Can Help Keep the Encyclopedia Free