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The Definition of Art
The definition of art is controversial in contemporary philosophy. Whether art can be defined has also been a matter of controversy. The philosophical usefulness of a definition of art has also been debated.
Contemporary definitions are of two main sorts. One distinctively modern, conventionalist, sort of definition focuses on art's institutional features, emphasizing the way art changes over time, modern works that appear to break radically with all traditional art, and the relational properties of artworks that depend on works' relations to art history, art genres, etc. The less conventionalist sort of contemporary definition makes use of a broader, more traditional concept of aesthetic properties that includes more than art-relational ones, and focuses on art's pan-cultural and trans-historical characteristics.
- 1. Constraints on Definitions of Art
- 2. Traditional Definitions
- 3. Skepticism about Definitions
- 4. Contemporary Definitions
- 5. Conclusion
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Any definition of art has to square with the following uncontroversial facts: (i) entities (artifacts or performances) intentionally endowed by their makers with a significant degree of aesthetic interest, often surpassing that of most everyday objects, exist in virtually every known human culture; (ii) such entities, and traditions devoted to them, might be produced by non-human species, and might exist in other possible worlds; (iii) such entities sometimes have non-aesthetic — ceremonial or religious or propagandistic — functions, and sometimes do not; (iv) traditionally, artworks are intentionally endowed by their makers with properties, usually perceptual, having a significant degree of aesthetic interest, often surpassing that of most everyday objects; (v) art, so understood, has a complicated history: new genres and art-forms develop, standards of taste evolve, understandings of aesthetic properties and aesthetic experience change; (vi) there are institutions in some but not all cultures which involve a focus on artifacts and performances having a high degree of aesthetic interest and lacking any practical, ceremonial, or religious use; (vii) such institutions sometimes classify entities apparently lacking aesthetic interest with entities having a high degree of aesthetic interest; (viii) many things other than artworks — for example, natural entities (sunsets, landscapes, flowers, shadows), human beings, and abstract entities (theories, proofs) are routinely described as having aesthetic properties.
Of these facts, those having to do with art's cultural and historical features are emphasized by some definitions of art. Other definitions of art give priority to explaining those facts that reflect art's universality and continuity with other aesthetic phenomena.
There are also two more general constraints on definitions of art. First, given that accepting that something is inexplicable is generally a philosophical last resort, and granting the importance of extensional adequacy, list-like or enumerative definitions are if possible to be avoided. Enumerative definitions, lacking principles that explain why what is on the list is on the list, don't, notoriously, apply to definienda that evolve, and provide no clue to the next or general case (Tarski's definition of truth, for example, is standardly criticized as unenlightening because it rests on a list-like definition of primitive denotation; see Devitt 2001; Davidson 2005). Second, given that most classes outside of mathematics are vague, and that the existence of borderline cases is characteristic of vague classes, definitions that take the class of artworks to have borderline cases are preferable to definitions that don't (Davies 1991 and 2006, Stecker 2005).
Whether any definition of art does account for these facts and satisfy these constraints, or could account for these facts and satisfy these constraints, are key questions for the philosophy of art.
Traditional definitions, at least as commonly portrayed in contemporary discussions of the definition of art, take artworks to be characterized by a single type of property. The standard candidates are representational properties, expressive properties, and formal properties. So there are representational or mimetic definitions, expressive definitions, and formalist definitions, which hold that artworks are characterized by their possession of, respectively, representational, expressive, and formal properties. It is not difficult to find fault with these simple definitions. For example, possessing representational, expressive, and formal properties cannot be sufficient conditions, since, obviously, instructional manuals are representations, but not typically artworks, human faces and gestures have expressive properties without being works of art, and both natural objects and artifacts produced for the homeliest utilitarian purposes have formal properties but are not artworks.
But the ease of these dismissals serves as a reminder of the fact that traditional definitions of art are not self-contained. Each traditional definition stands in (different) close and complicated relationships to its system's other complexly interwoven parts — epistemology, ontology, value theory, philosophy of mind, etc. For this reason, it is both difficult and somewhat misleading to extract them and consider them in isolation. Two examples of historically influential definitions of art offered by great philosophers will suffice to illustrate. First, Plato holds in the Republic and elsewhere that the arts are representational, or mimetic (sometimes translated “imitative”). Artworks are ontologically dependent on, and inferior to, ordinary physical objects, which in turn are ontologically dependent on, and inferior to, what is most real, the non-physical Forms. Grasped perceptually, artworks present only an appearance of an appearance of what is really real. Consequently, artistic experience cannot yield knowledge. Nor do the makers of artworks work from knowledge. Because artworks engage an unstable, lower part of the soul, art should be subservient to moral realities, which, along with truth, are more metaphysically fundamental and hence more humanly important than beauty. Beauty is not, for Plato, the distinctive province of the arts, and in fact his conception of beauty is extremely wide and metaphysical: there is a Form of Beauty, of which we can have non-perceptual knowledge, but it is more closely related to the erotic than to the arts. (See Janaway, and the entry on Plato on Rhetoric and Poetry.) Second, although Kant has a definition of art, he is for systematic reasons far less concerned with it than with aesthetic judgment. Kant defines art as “a kind of representation that is purposive in itself and, though without an end, nevertheless promotes the cultivation of the mental powers for sociable communication” (Kant, Critique of Judgment, Guyer translation, section 44).) The definition, when fully unpacked, has representational, formalist and expressivist elements. Located conceptually in a much broader discussion of aesthetic judgment and teleology, the definition is one relatively small piece of a hugely ambitious philosophical structure that attempts, famously, to account for, and work out the relationships between, scientific knowledge, morality, and religious faith. (See the entry on Kant's Aesthetics and Teleology.) For treatments of influential definitions of art, inseparable from the complex philosophical systems in which they occur, see, for example, the entries on 18th Century German Aesthetics, Arthur Schopenhauer, Friedrich Nietzsche, and Dewey's Aesthetics.
Skepticism about the possibility and value of a definition of art has been an important part of the discussion in aesthetics since the 1950s on, and though its influence has subsided, uneasiness about the definitional project persists. (See section 4, below, and also Kivy 1997, and Walton 2007).
A common family of arguments, inspired by Wittgenstein's famous remarks about games (Wittgenstein, 1953), has it that the phenomena of art are, by their nature, too diverse to admit of the unification that a satisfactory definition strives for, or that a definition of art, were there to be such a thing, would exert a stifling influence on artistic creativity. One expression of this impulse is Weitz's Open Concept Argument: any concept is open if a case can be imagined which would call for some sort of decision on our part to extend the use of the concept to cover it, or to close the concept and invent a new one to deal with the new case; all open concepts are indefinable; and there are cases calling for a decision about whether to extend or close the concept of art. Hence art is indefinable (Weitz, 1956). Against this it is claimed that change does not, in general, rule out the preservation of identity over time, that decisions about concept-expansion may be principled rather than capricious, and that nothing bars a definition of art from incorporating a novelty requirement.
A second sort of argument, less common today than in the heyday of a certain form of extreme Wittgensteinianism, urges that the concepts that make up the stuff of most definitions of art (expressiveness, form) are embedded in general philosophical theories which incorporate traditional metaphysics and epistemology. But since traditional metaphysics and epistemology are prime instances of language gone on conceptually confused holiday, definitions of art share in the conceptual confusions of traditional philosophy (Tilghman).
A third sort of argument, more historically inflected than the first, takes off from an influential study by the historian of philosophy Paul Kristeller, in which he argued that the modern system of the five major arts [painting, sculpture, architecture, poetry, and music] which underlies all modern aesthetics … is of comparatively recent origin and did not assume definite shape before the eighteenth century, although it had many ingredients which go back to classical, mediaeval, and Renaissance thought. Since that list of five arts is somewhat arbitrary, and since even those five do not share a single common nature, but rather are united, at best, only by several overlapping features, and since the number of art forms has increased since the eighteenth century, Kristeller's work may be taken to suggest that our concept of art differs from that of the eighteenth century. As a matter of historical fact, there simply is no stable definiendum for a definition of art to capture.
A fourth sort of argument suggests that a definition of art stating individually necessary and jointly sufficient conditions for a thing to be an artwork, is likely to be discoverable only if cognitive science makes it plausible to think that humans categorize things in terms of necessary and sufficient conditions. But, the argument continues, cognitive science actually supports the view that the structure of concepts mirrors the way humans categorize things – which is with respect to their similarity to prototypes (or exemplars), and not in terms of necessary and sufficient conditions. So the quest for a definition of art that states individually necessary and jointly sufficient conditions is misguided and not likely to succeed (Dean, 2003). Against this it has been urged that psychological theories of concepts like the prototype theory and its relatives can provide at best an account of how people in fact classify things, but not an account of correct classifications of extra-psychological phenomena, and that, even if relevant, prototype theory and other psychological theories of concepts are at present too controversial to draw substantive philosophical morals from (Rey, 1983; Adajian, 2005).
A fifth sort of argument concludes that defining art is philosophically unnecessary, on the grounds that the problem of defining art reduces to a pair of easier sorts of problems: the problem of giving an account of each individual artform, and the problem of defining what it is to be an artform. That is, given definitions of the individual artforms, and a definition of what it is to be an artform, and given, crucially, that every artwork belongs to some artform, a definition of art falls out: x is a work of art if and only if x is a work in activity P, and P is one of the artforms (Lopes, 2008). Every artwork belongs to an artform, on this view, because every artwork either belongs to an existing artwork or else pioneers a new artform. The key claim that every work of art belonging to no extant artform pioneers a new one may be defended on the grounds that any reason to say that a work belonging to no extant artform is an artwork is a reason to say that it pioneers a new artform. In response, it is noted that an activity might be ruled out as an artform on the grounds that no artworks belong to it, and that the question of whether or not a thing belongs to an artform arises only because there is a prior reason for thinking that the thing is an artwork. So determining whether a practice is an artform requires determining that its elements are artworks. Art, therefore, seems conceptually prior to artforms. An account of the complex analysandum artform seems to require an analysis of each component — an analysis of what it is to be an artform no less than an analysis of what it is to be an artform (Adajian, 2012).
A sixth sort of objection rejects the project of defining art as an unwitting (and confused) expression of a harmful ideology. On this view, the search for a definition of art presupposes, wrongly, that the concept of the aesthetic is a creditable one. But since the concept of the aesthetic necessarily involves the equally bankrupt concept of disinterestedness, its deployment advances the illusion that what is most real about things can and should be grasped or contemplated without attending to the social and economic conditions of their production. Definitions of art, consequently, spuriously confer ontological dignity and respectability on social phenomena that probably in fact call more properly for rigorous social criticism and change. Their real function is ideological, not philosophical (Eagleton 1990).
A seventh argument against defining art, with a normative tinge that is psychologistic rather than sociopolitical, takes the fact that there is no philosophical consensus about the definition of art as reason to hold that no unitary concept of art exists. Concepts of art, like all concepts, after all, should be used for the purpose(s) they best serve. But not all concepts of art serve all purposes equally well. So not all art concepts should be used for the same purposes. Art should be defined only if there is a unitary concept of art that serves all of art's various purposes – historical, conventional, aesthetic, appreciative, communicative, and so on. So, since there is no purpose-independent use of the concept of art, art should not be defined (Mag Uidhir and Magnus, 2011; cf. Meskin 2008). In response, it is noted that an account of what makes various concepts of art concepts of art is still required, which leaves open the possibility of important commonalities. The fact (if it is one) that different concepts of art are used for different purposes does not itself imply that they are not connected in systematic, ordered ways. The relation between (say) the historical concept of art and the appreciative concept of art is not an accidental, unsystematic relation, like that between river banks and savings banks, but is something like the relation between Socrates' healthiness and the healthiness of Socrates' diet. That is, it is not evident that there exist a multiplicity of art concepts, constituting an unsystematic patchwork. Perhaps there is a single concept of art with different facets that interlock in an ordered way, or else a multiplicity of concepts that constitute a unity because one is at the core, and the others depend on it, but not conversely. (The last is an instance of core-dependent homonymy; see the entry on Aristotle, section on Essentialism and Homonymy.) Multiplicity alone doesn't entail pluralism.
Philosophers influenced by the moderate Wittgensteinian strictures discussed above have offered family resemblance accounts of art, which, as they purport to be non-definitions, may be usefully considered at this point. Two species of family resemblance views will be considered: the resemblance-to-a-paradigm version, and the cluster version.
On the resemblance-to-a-paradigm version, something is, or is identifiable as, an artwork if it resembles, in the right way, certain paradigm artworks, which possess most although not necessarily all of art's typical features. (The “is identifiable” qualification is intended to make the family resemblance view something more epistemological than a definition, although it is unclear that this really avoids a commitment to constitutive claims about art's nature.) Against this view: since things do not resemble each other simpliciter, but only in at least one respect or other, the account is either far too inclusive, since everything resembles everything else in some respect or other, or, if the variety of resemblance is specified, tantamount to a definition, since resemblance in that respect will be either a necessary or sufficient condition for being an artwork. The family resemblance view raises questions, moreover, about the membership and unity of the class of paradigm artworks. If the account lacks an explanation of why some items and not others go on the list of paradigm works, it seems explanatorily deficient. But if it includes a principle that governs membership on the list, or if expertise is required to constitute the list, then the principle, or whatever properties the experts' judgments track, seem to be doing the philosophical work.
The cluster version of the family resemblance view has been defended by a number of philosophers (Gaut 2000, Dissanayake 1990, Dutton 2006). The view typically provides a list of properties, no one of which is a necessary condition for being a work of art, but which are jointly sufficient for being a work of art, and which is such that at least one proper subset thereof is sufficient for being a work of art. Lists offered vary, but overlap considerably. Here is one: (1) possessing positive aesthetic properties; (2) being expressive of emotion; (3) being intellectually challenging; (4) being formally complex and coherent; (5) having the capacity to convey complex meanings; (6) exhibiting an individual point of view; (7) being original; (8) being an artifact or performance which is the product of a high degree of skill; (9) belonging to an established artistic form; (10) being the product of an intention to make a work of art (Gaut 2000). The cluster account has been criticized on several grounds. First, given its logical structure, it is in fact equivalent to a long, complicated, but finite, disjunction, which makes it difficult to see why it isn't a definition (Davies 2006). Second, if the list of properties is incomplete, as some cluster theorists hold, then some justification or principle would be needed for extending it. Third, the inclusion of the ninth property on the list, belonging to an established art form, seems to invite, rather than answer, the definitional question. Finally, it is worth noting that, although cluster theorists stress what they take to be the motley nature of the class of artworks, they tend with surprising regularity to appeal tacitly to a unifying principle that unites the properties they put forward as non-definitional. One cluster theorist, for example, gives a list very similar to the one discussed above (it includes representational properties, expressiveness, creativity, exhibiting a high degree of skill, belonging to an established artform), but omits aesthetic properties on the grounds that it is the combination of the other items on the list which, combined in the experience of the work of art, are precisely the aesthetic qualities of the work (Dutton, 2006). Gaut, whose list is cited above, includes aesthetic properties as a separate item on the list, but construes them very narrowly; the difference between these ways of formulating the cluster view appears to be mainly nominal. And an earlier cluster theorist defines artworks as all and only those things that belong to any instantiation of an artform, offers a list of seven properties all of which together are intended to capture the core of what it is to be an artform, though none is either necessary or sufficient, and then claims that having aesthetic value (of the same sort as mountains, sunsets, mathematical theorems) is “what art is for” (Bond, 1975).
Definitions of art attempt to make sense of two different sorts of facts: art has important historically contingent cultural features, and it also, arguably, has trans-historical, trans-cultural characteristics that point in the direction of a relatively stable aesthetic core. (Theorists who regard art as an invention of eighteenth-century Europe will, of course, regard this way of putting the matter as tendentious, on the grounds that entities produced outside that culturally distinctive institution do not fall under the extension of “art” and hence are irrelevant to the art-defining project (Shiner 2001). Whether the concept of art is precise enough to justify this much confidence about what falls under its extension claim is unclear.) Conventionalist definitions take art's cultural features to be explanatorily fundamental, and attempt to capture the phenomena —revolutionary modern art, the traditional close connection of art with the aesthetic, the possibility of autonomous art traditions, etc. — in social/historical terms. Non-conventionalist or “functionalist” definitions reverse this explanatory order, taking a concept like the aesthetic (or some allied concept like the formal, or the expressive) as basic, and aim to account for the phenomena by working that concept harder, perhaps extending it to non-perceptual properties.
Conventionalist definitions deny that art has essential connection to aesthetic properties, or to formal properties, or to expressive properties, or to any type of property taken by traditional definitions to be essential to art. Conventionalist definitions have been strongly influenced by the emergence, in the twentieth century, of artworks that seem to differ radically from all previous artworks. Avante-garde works like Marcel Duchamp's “ready-mades” – ordinary unaltered objects like snow-shovels (In Advance of the Broken Arm) and bottle-racks — conceptual works like Robert Barry's All the things I know but of which I am not at the moment thinking — 1:36 PM; June 15, 1969, and John Cage's 4′33″, have seemed to many philosophers to lack or even, somehow, repudiate, the traditional properties of art: intended aesthetic interest, artifactuality, even perceivability. Conventionalist definitions have also been strongly influenced by the work of a number of historically-minded philosophers, who have documented the rise and development of modern ideas of the fine arts, the individual arts, the work of art, and the aesthetic (Kristeller, Shiner, Carroll, Goehr, Kivy).
Conventionalist definitions come in two varieties, institutional and historical. Institutionalist conventionalism, or institutionalism, a synchronic view, typically hold that to be a work of art is to be an artifact of a kind created, by an artist, to be presented to an artworld public (Dickie, 1984). Historical conventionalism, a diachronic view, holds that artworks necessarily stand in an art-historical relation to some set of earlier artworks.
The groundwork for institutional definitions was laid by Arthur Danto, better known to non-philosophers as the long-time influential art critic for the Nation. Danto coined the term “artworld”, by which he meant “an atmosphere of art theory.” Danto's definition has been glossed as follows: something is a work of art if and only if (i) it has a subject (ii) about which it projects some attitude or point of view (has a style) (iii) by means of rhetorical ellipsis (usually metaphorical) which ellipsis engages audience participation in filling in what is missing, and (iv) where the work in question and the interpretations thereof require an art historical context (Danto, Carroll). Clause (iv) is what makes the definition institutionalist. The view has been criticized for entailing that art criticism written in a highly rhetorical style is art, lacking but requiring an independent account of what makes a context art historical, and for not applying to music.
The most prominent and influential institutionalism is that of George Dickie. Dickie's institutionalism has evolved over time. According to an early version, a work of art is an artifact upon which some person(s) acting on behalf of the artworld has conferred the status of candidate for appreciation (Dickie 1971). The most recent version consists of an interlocking set of five definitions: (1) An artist is a person who participates with understanding in the making of a work of art. (2) A work of art is an artifact of a kind created to be presented to an artworld public. (3) A public is a set of persons the members of which are prepared in some degree to understand an object which is presented to them. (4) The artworld is the totality of all artworld systems. (5) An artworld system is a framework for the presentation of a work of art by an artist to an artworld public (Dickie, 1984). Both versions have been widely criticized. Philosophers have objected that art created outside any institution seems possible, although the definition rules it out, and that the artworld, like any institution, seems capable of error. It has also been urged that the definition's obvious circularity is vicious, and that, given the inter-definition of the key concepts (artwork, artworld system, artist, artworld public) it lacks any informative way of distinguishing art institutions systems from other, structurally similar, social institutions (D. Davies, 2004, pp. 248–249, mentions the “commerceworld”). Early on, Dickie claimed that anyone who sees herself as a member of the artworld is a member of the artworld: if this is true, then unless there are constraints on the kinds of things the artworld can put forward as artworks or candidate artworks, any entity can be an artwork (though not all are). Finally, Matravers has helpfully distinguished strong and weak institutionalism. Strong institutionalism holds that there is some reason that is always the reason the art institution has for saying that something is a work of art. Weak institutionalism holds that, for every work of art, there is some reason or other that the institution has for saying that it is a work of art (Matravers 2000). Weak institutionalism, in particular, raises questions about art's unity: if nothing unifies the reasons that the artworld gives for designating entities as artworks, the unity of the class of artworks is vanishingly small.
Historical definitions hold that what characterizes artworks is standing in some specified art-historical relation to some specified earlier artworks, and disavow any commitment to a trans-historical concept of art, or the “artish.” Historical definitions come in several varieties. All of them are, or resemble, inductive definitions: they claim that certain entities belong unconditionally to the class of artworks, while others do so because they stand in the appropriate relations thereto. According to the best known version, Levinson's intentional-historical definition, an artwork is a thing that has been seriously intended for regard in any way preexisting or prior artworks are or were correctly regarded (Levinson 1990). A second version, historical functionalism says that an item is an artwork at time t, where t is not earlier than the time at which the item is made, if and only if it is in one of the central art forms at t and is made with the intention of fulfilling a function art has at t or it is an artifact that achieves excellence in achieving such a function (Stecker 2005). A third version, historical narrativism, comes in several varieties. On one, a sufficient but not necessary condition for the identification of a candidate as a work of art is the construction of a true historical narrative according to which the candidate was created by an artist in an artistic context with a recognized and live artistic motivation, and as a result of being so created, it resembles at least one acknowledged artwork (Carroll 1993). On another, more ambitious and overtly nominalistic version of historical narrativism, something is an artwork if and only if (1) there are internal historical relations between it and already established artworks; (2) these relations are correctly identified in a narrative; and (3) that narrative is accepted by the relevant experts. The experts do not detect that certain entities are artworks; rather, the fact that the experts assert that certain properties are significant in particular cases is constitutive of art (Stock, 2003).
The similarity of these views to institutionalism is obvious, and the criticisms offered parallel those urged against institutionalism. First, historical definitions appear to require, but lack, any informative characterization of art traditions (art functions, artistic contexts, etc.) and hence any way of informatively distinguishing them (and likewise art functions, or artistic predecessors) from non-art traditions (non-art functions, non-artistic predecessors). Correlatively, non-Western art, or alien, autonomous art of any kind appears to pose a problem for historical views: any autonomous art tradition or artworks — terrestrial, extra-terrestrial, or merely possible — causally isolated from our art tradition, is either ruled out by the definition, which seems to be a reductio, or included, which concedes the existence of a supra-historical concept of art. So, too, there could be entities that for adventitious reasons are not correctly identified in historical narratives, although in actual fact they stand in relations to established artworks that make them correctly describable in narratives of the appropriate sort. Historical definitions entail that such entities aren't artworks, but it seems more plausible to say that they are artworks that are unidentified as such. Second, historical definitions also require, but do not provide a satisfactory, informative account of the basis case – the first artworks, or ur-artworks, in the case of the intentional-historical definitions, or the first or central art-forms, in the case of historical functionalism. Third, nominalistic historical definitions seem to face a version of the Euthyphro dilemma. For either such definitions include substantive characterizations of what it is to be an expert, or they don't. If, on one hand, they include no characterization of what it is to be an expert, and hence no explanation as to why the list of experts contains the people it does, then they imply that what makes things artworks is inexplicable. On the other hand, suppose that the status of experts is substantively grounded, so that to be an expert is to possess some ability lacked by non-experts (taste, say) in virtue of the possession of which they are able to discern historical connections between established artworks and candidate artworks. Then the definition's claim to be interestingly historical is questionable, because it makes art status a function of whatever ability it is that permits experts to discern the art-making properties.
Defenders of historical definitions have replies. First, as regards autonomous art traditions, it can be held that anything we would recognize as an art tradition or an artistic practice would display aesthetic concerns, because aesthetic concerns have been central from the start, and persisted centrally for thousands of years, in the Western art tradition. Hence it is an historical, not a conceptual truth that anything we recognize as an art practice will centrally involve the aesthetic; it is just that aesthetic concerns that have always dominated our art tradition (Levinson 2002). The idea here is that if the reason that anything we'd take to be a Φ-tradition would have Ψ-concerns is that our Φ-tradition has focused on Ψ-concerns since its inception, then it is not essential to Φ-traditions that they have Ψ-concerns, and Φ is a purely historical concept. But this principle entails, implausibly, that every concept is purely historical. Suppose that we discovered a new civilization whose inhabitants could predict how the physical world works with great precision, on the basis of a substantial body of empirically acquired knowledge that they had accumulated over centuries. The reason we would credit them with having a scientific tradition might well be that our own scientific tradition has since its inception focused on explaining things. It does not seem to follow that science is a purely historical concept with no essential connection to explanatory aims. (Other theorists hold that it is historically necessary that art begins with the aesthetic, but deny that art's nature is to be defined in terms of its historical unfolding (Davies 1997).) Second, as to the first artworks, or the central art-forms or functions, some theorists hold that an account of them can only take the form of an enumeration. Stecker takes this approach: he says that the account of what makes something a central art form at a given time is, at its core, institutional, and that the central artforms can only be listed (Stecker, 1997, and 2005). Whether relocating the list at a different, albeit deeper, level in the definition renders the definition sufficiently perspicuous is an open question. Third, as to the Euthyphro-style dilemma, it might be held that the categorial distinction between artworks and “mere real things” (Danto, 1981) explains the distinction between experts and non-experts. Experts are able, it is said, to create new categories of art. When created, new categories bring with them new universes of discourse. New universes of discourse in turn make reasons available that otherwise would not be available. Hence, on this view, it is both the case that the experts' say-so alone suffices to make mere real things into artworks, and also true that experts' conferrals of art-status have reasons (McFee, 2011).
Functional definitions take some function(s) or intended function(s) to be definitive of artworks. Here only aesthetic definitions, which connect art essentially with the aesthetic — aesthetic judgments, experience, or properties – will be considered. Different aesthetic definitions incorporate different views of aesthetic properties and judgments. See the entry on aesthetic judgment.
As noted above, some philosophers lean heavily on a distinction between aesthetic properties and artistic properties, taking the former to be perceptually striking qualities that can be directly perceived in works, without knowledge of their origin and purpose, and the latter to be relational properties that works possess in virtue of their relations to art history, art genres, etc. It is also, of course, possible to hold a less restrictive view of aesthetic properties, on which aesthetic properties need not be perceptual; on this broader view, it is unnecessary to deny that abstracta like mathematical entities and scientific laws possess aesthetic properties.)
Monroe Beardsley's definition holds that an artwork: “either an arrangement of conditions intended to be capable of affording an experience with marked aesthetic character or (incidentally) an arrangement belonging to a class or type of arrangements that is typically intended to have this capacity” (Beardsley, 1982, p. 299). For more on Beardsley, see SEP, Beardsley's Aesthetics)Beardsley's conception of aesthetic experience is Deweyan: aesthetic experiences are experiences that are complete, unified, intense experiences of the way things appear to us, and are, moreover, experiences which are controlled by the things experienced (see the entry on Dewey's aesthetics). Zangwill's aesthetic definition of art says that something is a work of art if and only if someone had an insight that certain aesthetic properties would be determined by certain nonaesthetic properties, and for this reason the thing was intentionally endowed with the aesthetic properties in virtue of the nonaesthetic properties as envisaged in the insight (Zangwill, 1995). Aesthetic properties for Zangwill are those judgments that are the subject of “verdictive aesthetic judgments” (judgements of beauty and ugliness) and “substantive aesthetic judgements” (e.g., of daintiness, elegance, delicacy, etc.). The latter are ways of being beautiful or ugly; aesthetic in virtue of a special close relation to verdictive judgments, which are subjectively universal. Other aesthetic definitions are easily obtained, by grafting on a different account of the aesthetic. For example, one might define aesthetic properties as those having an evaluative component, whose perception involves the perception of certain formal base properties, such as shape and color (De Clercq 2002).
Views which combine features of institutional and aesthetic definitions also exist. Iseminger, for example, builds a definition on an account of appreciation, on which to appreciate a thing's being F is to find experiencing its being F to be valuable in itself, and an account of aesthetic communication (which it is the function of the artworld to promote) (Iseminger, 2004). Another definition that combines features of institutional and aesthetic definitions is David Davies'. Davies adopts Nelson Goodman's account of symbolic functions that are aesthetic (a symbol functions aesthetically when it is syntactically dense, semantically dense, syntactically replete, and characterized by multiple and complex reference, which he takes to clarify the conditions under which a practice of making is a practice of artistic making (Davies 2004, Goodman 1968).
Aesthetic definitions have been criticized for being both too narrow and too broad. They are held to be too narrow because they are unable to cover influential modern works like Duchamp's ready-mades and conceptual works like Robert Barry's All the things I know but of which I am not at the moment thinking — 1:36 PM; June 15, 1969, which appear to lack aesthetic properties. (Duchamp famously asserted that his urinal, Fountain, was selected for its lack of aesthetic features.) Aesthetic definitions are held to be too broad because beautifully designed automobiles, neatly manicured lawns, and products of commercial design are often created with the intention of being objects of aesthetic appreciation, but are not artworks. Moreover, aesthetic views have been held to have trouble making sense of bad art. (see Dickie 2001, and S. Davies 2006, p. 37) Finally, more radical doubts about aesthetic definitions center on the intelligibility and usefulness of the aesthetic. Beardsley's view, for example, has been criticized by Dickie, who has also offered influential criticisms of the idea of an aesthetic attitude (Dickie 1965, Cohen 1973, Kivy 1975).
To these criticisms several responses have been offered. First, the less restrictive conception of aesthetic properties mentioned above, on which they may be based on non-perceptual formal properties, can be deployed. On this view, conceptual works would have aesthetic features, much the same way that mathematical entities are often claimed to (Shelley 2003, Carroll 2004). Second, a distinction may be drawn between time-sensitive properties, whose standard observation conditions include an essential reference to temporal location of the observer, and non-time-sensitive properties, which do not. Higher-order aesthetic properties like drama, humor, and irony, which account for a significant part of the appeal of Duchamp's and Cage's works, on this view, would derive from time-sensitive properties (Zemach 1997). Third, it might be held that it is the creative act of presenting something that is in the relevant sense unfamiliar, into a new context, the artworld, which has aesthetic properties. Or, fourth, it might be held that (Zangwill's “second-order” strategy) works like ready-mades lack aesthetic functions, but are parasitic upon, because meant to be considered in the context of, works that do have aesthetic functions, and therefore constitute mere borderline cases. Finally, it can be flatly denied that the ready-mades were works of art (Beardsley 1982).
As to the over-inclusiveness of aesthetic definitions, a distinction might be drawn between primary and secondary functions. Or it may be maintained that some cars, lawns, and products of industrial design are on the art/non-art borderline, and so don't constitute clear and decisive counter-examples. Or, if the claim that aesthetic theories fail to account for bad art depends on holding that some works have absolutely no aesthetic value whatsoever, as opposed to some non-zero amount, however infinitesimal, it may be wondered what justifies that assumption.
Conventionalist definitions account well for modern art, but have difficulty accounting for art's universality – especially the fact that there can be art disconnected from “our” (Western) institutions and traditions, and our species. They also struggle to account for the fact that the same aesthetic terms are routinely applied to artworks, natural objects, humans, and abstracta. Aesthetic definitions do better accounting for art's traditional, universal features, but less well, at least according to their critics, with revolutionary modern art; their further defense requires an account of the aesthetic which can be extended in a principled way to conceptual and other radical art. (An aesthetic definition and a conventionalist one could simply be conjoined. But that would merely raise, without answering, the fundamental question of the unity or disunity of the class of artworks.) Which defect is the more serious one depends on which explananda are the more important. Arguments at this level are hard to come by, because positions are hard to motivate in ways that do not depend on prior conventionalist and functionalist sympathies. If list-like definitions are flawed because uninformative, then so are conventionalist definitions, whether institutional or historical. Of course, if the class of artworks is a mere chaotic heap, lacking any genuine unity, then enumerative definitions cannot be faulted for being uninformative: they do all the explaining that it is possible to do, because they capture all the unity that there is to capture. In that case the worry articulated by one prominent aesthetician, who wrote earlier of the “bloated, unwieldy” concept of art which institutional definitions aim to capture, needs to be taken seriously, even if it turns out to be ungrounded: “It is not at all clear that these words – ‘What is art?’ – express anything like a single question, to which competing answers are given, or whether philosophers proposing answers are even engaged in the same debate…. The sheer variety of proposed definitions should give us pause. One cannot help wondering whether there is any sense in which they are attempts to … clarify the same cultural practices, or address the same issue.” (Walton, 1977, 2007)
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aesthetics: aesthetic judgment | aesthetics: German, in the 18th century | Dewey, John: aesthetics | Kant, Immanuel: aesthetics and teleology | Nietzsche, Friedrich | Plato: rhetoric and poetry | Schopenhauer, Arthur