Greek Sources in Arabic and Islamic Philosophy
To some extent, scholars disagree about the role of the Greek sources in Arabic and Islamic philosophy (henceforth falsafa, the Arabic loan word for φιλοσοφία). While acknowledging the existence of a Greek heritage, those who consider the Qur’an and the Islamic tradition as the main source of inspiration for falsafa claim that the latter did not arise from the encounter of learned Muslims with the Greek philosophical heritage: instead, according to them falsafa stemmed from the Qur’anic hikma (“wisdom”). As a consequence, the Greek texts in translation are conceived of as instruments for the philosophers to perform the task of seeking wisdom. However, most scholars frequently side with the opinion that what gave rise to the intellectual tradition of falsafa was the so-called movement of translation from Greek. This entry will not discuss the issue, let alone try to settle it: it will limit itself to present the philosophical Greek sources made available from the beginnings of the translations into Arabic to the end of the 10th century. The reason for focusing on the various stages of the assimilation of the Greek heritage, instead of taking into account one by one all the works by Plato, Aristotle etc. known to Arabic readers, is that it is useful to get an idea of what was translated at different times. As a matter of fact, a living interplay took place, especially in the formative period of falsafa, between the doctrines of the philosophers writing in Arabic and the Greek sources made available. Of momentous importance for the development of falsafa was the simultaneous translation of Aristotle’s Metaphysics and De Caelo, some writings by Alexander of Aphrodisias (most of them of a cosmological nature), Plotinus’ Enneads IV–VI, and Elements of Theology by Proclus. Al-Kindi, the first faylasuf, initiated the incorporation of the Aristotelian, Peripatetic and Neoplatonic doctrines; at the same time, he reproduced them in his philosophical works. Later on, the knowledge of the complete Aristotelian corpus provided by another generation of translators, without altering substantially this picture, produced a different approach. The Aristotelian science as a systematic whole, ruled by demonstration and made available together with Euclid, Ptolemy, Hippocrates and Galen, paved the way for al-Farabi to build up the project of a curriculum of higher education, which was meant to subsume the native Islamic sciences in the broader system of the liberal arts and philosophical sciences. Both the cross-pollination of the Aristotelian and Neoplatonic traditions of the Kindian age, and the rise of a complete system of rational sciences in the light of Farabi’s educational syllabus of the philosopher-king, lie in the background of Avicenna’s program to provide the summa of demonstrative science—from logic to philosophical theology—as a necessary step for the soul to return to its origin, the intelligible realm (Endress 2006). When Averroes, two centuries after the end of the age of the translations, resumed the project of building up the demonstrative science as a systematic whole, he had recourse to the Greek sources in Arabic translation which were available in the Muslim West, mostly Aristotle and his commentators.
- 1. The Syriac Background
- 2. Early translations into Arabic
- 3. The translations of the “circle of al-Kindi”: Aristotle, the Neoplatonic tradition and the rise of falsafa.
- 4. The translations of Hunayn ibn Ishaq, his son Ishaq and their associates: the complete Aristotelian corpus and Alexander of Aphrodisias’s universe
- 5. The translations of Abu Bishr Matta ibn Yunus, Yahya ibn ʿAdi and the Baghdad Aristotelians: the “Humanism” of the Buyid Age
- Academic Tools
- Other Internet Resources
- Related Entries
Before the rise of Islam, a multisecular tradition of learning (Brock 1977, 1994; Bettiolo 2005; Watt 2010) had already achieved in Syria the transition “from antagonism to assimilation” (Brock 1982) of the Greek philosophical culture, especially but not exclusively Aristotelian. Within the theological schools of Edessa and Nisibi, during the 4th and 5th centuries, not only were the exegetical works translated from Greek into Syriac (e.g. those of Theodorus of Mopsuestia), but so were philosophical works (in particular, Aristotle’s logical writings and Porphyry’s Isagoge). The continuity between the Neoplatonic schools of late Antiquity, with their typical approach to the Aristotelian corpus (Hadot 1991), is best exemplified by Sergius of Reshʿayna (d. 536), a physician who held a prominent position in the Syriac Church (Hugonnard-Roche 2001, 2004). A former student of Ammonius in the Neoplatonic school of Alexandria, Sergius translated into Syriac some thirty treatises by Galen, the pseudo-Aristotelian De Mundo, a treatise by Alexander of Aphrodisias, On the Principles of the All (lost in Greek), the writings of Dionysius the Pseudo-Areopagite and Evagrius Ponticus (Watt 2011); he is also the author of a treatise on Aristotle’s Categories and another one on the scope of Aristotle’s writings. After the Arab conquest of Damascus (635) and the whole of Syria (636), the Christian intellectual communities living under the Umayyad Caliphate (661–750) continued to assimilate Greek philosophy and science, focusing in particular on the Aristotelian logical corpus together with its Neoplatonic introduction, namely, Porphyry’s Isagoge. This tradition of learning (Gutas 1983; Brock 1993; Hugonnard-Roche 2004; 2007; 2009; 2011) lay in the background of many of the Christians of Syria who took part in the translation movement fostered by the early ʿAbbasid Caliphate (Watt 2004, Janos 2015). Albeit superseded in number and importance by the translations into Arabic, translations into Syriac continued even amidts the growing translations into Arabic, in the ʿAbbasid capital of Baghdad.
Already in Damascus, under the Umayyads, some philosophical writings had been translated into Arabic. Salim Abu l-ʿAla’, secretary to the caliph Hisham ibn ʿAbd al-Malik (r. 724–743), initiated the translation of the pseudo-Aristotelian letters on government to Alexander the Great. This collection forms the nucleus of the most famous among the “mirrors for princes”, the Sirr al-asrar (Grignaschi 1967, 1976; Manzalaoui 1974), known in the Latin Middle Ages and early modern times as the Secretum secretorum. One of the Arabic translations of the pseudo-Aristotelian De Mundo also traces back to this period (Grignaschi 1965–66). However, it was under the ʿAbbasids (750–1258), and in particular in the first two centuries of their caliphate, that the translations blossomed.
Apparently, the first translations of the ʿAbbasid era were produced under the caliphate of al-Mansur (r. 754–775): his secretary Ibn al-Muqaffaʿ (d. 756) is credited with the translation (or production) of a compendium of Porphyry’s Isagoge, plus the Categories, De Intepretatione and Prior Analytics. It has been contended (Gabrieli 1932, Kraus 1934) that this authorship rests on a mistake and that this work should be attributed to his son, Muhammad ibn ʿAbdallah al-Muqaffaʿ (fl. under the reign of al-Ma’mun, see below); however, other scholars accept the father’s authorship, with the result that a companion of Aristotelian logic was already available in the first decades of the ʿAbbasid caliphate, under the ruler who founded Baghdad (762). His son and successor al-Mahdi (r. 775–785) had the Topics translated for him by the Nestorian Patriarch Timothy I (d. 823). It has been advanced that the ancient Arabic translation of the Rhetoric, “edited” by Ibn al-Samh (d. 1027), traces back to the 8th century (Aouad 1989c, 456–7). Under the reign of Harun al-Rashid (r. 786–809) a translation of Aristotle’s Physics was made by a certain Sallam al-Abrash. Neither translation has come down to us.
3. The translations of the “circle of al-Kindi”: Aristotle, the Neoplatonic tradition and the rise of falsafa.
A great deal of translations made under the reign of al-Ma’mun (r. 813–833) and his successors are extant. The new interpretation of Islam and of the role of the caliph promoted by al-Ma’mun, as well as the increasing interest in the secular sciences of the elites of Islamic society, created the context for the development of the translations into Arabic. Even though the court library (Bayt al-hikma,“House of Wisdom”) cannot be viewed as an institutional center for the translations of Greek works into Arabic, a close relationship existed between the activities of the first group of translators and the court. The leader of this group, the encyclopaedic scientist and first faylasuf Abu Yaʿqub ibn Ishaq al-Kindi, was appointed as the preceptor of the son of the successor of al-Ma’mun, al-Muʿtasim (r. 833–842): one of Kindi’s works is addressed to al-Ma’mun, whereas his major metaphysical writing, On First Philosophy, is addressed to al-Muʿtasim. How do we know that there was a group of translators and that al-Kindi was its leader? The ancient sources give a hint to this, in so far as they mention, for instance, that the earliest translation of Aristotle’s Metaphysics was made for him. Also, the incipit of the well-known Theology of Aristotle claims that he acted as the revisor of this work, in fact an adapted translation of parts of Plotinus’ Enneads IV–VI. Since it has been established (Endress 1973) that the same lexical and syntactical features of the two translations just mentioned are shared by other translations from Greek, one can be reasonably sure that several translators exchanged among themselves and with al-Kindi: the latter has been described as the spiritus rector of this group (Endress 1997a; 2007). The translations of this circle include works by Plato, Aristotle, Nicomachus of Gerasa, Alexander of Aphrodisias, Plotinus, Proclus, John Philoponus and Olympiodorus. It is worth noting that the texts of Plotinus, and in part those of Proclus and Philoponus, did not circulate under the names of their authors: Plotinus circulated under the name of Aristotle (Rosenthal 1974), Proclus under those of Aristotle and Alexander of Aphrodisias, and Philoponus under the name of Alexander (see below).
Plato. An early translation of the Timaeus is mentioned in the bio-bibliographical sources, but it has not come down to us. The circulation of at least parts of the Symposium, Phaedo (Aouad 1989a; Gutas 2012, 855), and Republic should be acknowledged in the age of al-Kindi.
Aristotle. The early translation of the Metaphysics made for al-Kindi has come down to us; the translator is the otherwise unknown Ustath. Other Aristotelian works translated within the Kindi’s circle are the Prior Analytics, Sophistici Elenchi, De Caelo, Meteorologica, De Generatione animalium and De Partibus animalium, Parva Naturalia and possibly the De Anima, plus a paraphrasis of this work in clear Neoplatonic vein (Arnzen 1998; 2003; Gannagé 2012, 533). As shown by Ullmann (2011–2012), the Arabic translation of Books V–X of the Nicomachean Ethics must be traced back to Ustath (see also Schmidt-Ullmann 2012). In addition to the genuine Aristotelian works, some pseudepigrapha were also either translated in this period, or produced within the circle of al-Kindi: these are of pivotal importance for the rise and development of falsafa. It has been established on firm grounds (Endress 1973) that the circle of al-Kindi produced the translation and reworking of significant parts of the Enneads IV–VI (known as the Theology of Aristotle) as well as the translation and reworking of Proclus’ Elements of Theology (known as the Book by Aristotle on the Pure Good). The Theology was the most influential of the two in the Arabic-speaking world, whereas the Book by Aristotle on the Pure Good was bound to become immensely famous in the Latin world, under the title Liber de Causis. Other pseudo-Aristotelian writings trace back to this period: the K. al-tuffaha (Liber de Pomo), namely, a reworking of the Phaedo with Aristotle replacing the dying Socrates (Aouad 1989a; Gutas 2012, 855), and a Physiognomic (Thomann 2003).
Nicomachus of Gerasa. The Introduction to Arithmetic was translated within the circle of al-Kindi (Altmann-Stern 1958, 35; Endress 1997a, 55; Freudenthal 2005).
Alexander of Aphrodisias. (i) Commentaries. The first book of Alexander’s commentary on the De Gen. corr., lost in Greek, is said to have been translated by Qusta ibn Luqa, a physician and translator who came from Baalbek to Baghdad in the first decades of the 9th century and had exchanges on medical and philosophical matters with al-Kindi. (ii) Personal works. Of prominent importance are two writings lost in Greek: On Providence (Fazzo-Wiesner 1993) and a cosmological treatise known in Arabic as On the First Cause, the effect and its movements (ed. Endress 2002). From the circle of al-Kindi comes also the translation of a series of Alexander’s genuine Quaestiones, intermingled in the manuscript sources with propositions of Proclus’ Elements of Theology, attributed to Alexander (Endress 1973; overview on the Arabic Alexander by Genequand 2011 and 2017).
Plotinus. Around AD 840 parts of Enneads IV–VI (devoted in the Porphyrian edition of Plotinus’ writings to soul, the intelligible world and the One) were translated into Arabic. The problems about this translation, and in particular about the transformation of parts of it into the Theology of Aristotle, are dealt with in a separate entry. For present purposes, it will suffice to mention the fact that at the beginning of the Theology of Aristotle an author, speaking as if he were Aristotle, proclaims to have devoted this treatise to the First Cause, Intellect and Soul, after having dealt with matter, form, the efficient and final causes in his Metaphysics. This proclaimed “Aristotelian” authorship of the Theology granted Plotinus’ doctrine an extraordinary impact on subsequent Arabic philosophy, especially in the East of the Muslim world.
Proclus. As we have seen before, the Elements of Theology were translated into Arabic within the circle of al-Kindi (Endress 1973; on later circulation, see Wakelnig 2006, 2011; up-to-date survey by Endress 2012); some propositions were attributed to Alexander of Aphrodisias under various titles—On the First Cause, On the Existence of Spiritual Forms with no matter, On the Difference between eternity and time, On Coming-to-be, On the Body (van Ess 1966; Endress 1973; Zimmermann 1994). This collection of Proclus’ propositions is sometimes labelled as Account of what Alexander has extracted from Aristotle’s book called Theology (Endress 1973, 53; Zimmermann 1986, 189–90; Goulet-Aouad 1989a, 133; Fazzo 2003, 64–5). Another writing by Proclus, extant in Greek only through the quotations by John Philoponus in his De Aeternitate mundi, was translated into Arabic in this period: the Eighteen arguments on the Eternity of the Cosmos against the Christians (Endress 1973, 15–16; Endress 2012, 1657–61; see also Wakelnig 2012).
John Philoponus. The bio-bibliographical sources mention his commentary on the Physics, translated partly by Ibn Naʿima al-Himsi and partly by Qusta ibn Luqa. Also, fragments of an adapted translation of parts of the De Aeternitate mundi were known under the name of Alexander of Aphrodisias (Hasnaoui 1994; Giannakis 2002–3; Gannagé 2012, 535–7).
Olympiodorus. A commentary on the De Gen. corr., lost in Greek, is said to have been translated by Ustath.
In addition to these works, translated within the circle of al-Kindi, two doxographies were translated into Arabic in this period: the Placita of the pseudo-Plutarch, accounting for Greek cosmologies from the Presocratics to the Stoics, and the Refutation of all the Heresies by Hyppolitus of Rome; the latter was reworked in light of the theological discussions of the 9th century Baghdad and attributed to Ammonius, the Alexandrian commentator of Aristotle.
Thanks to this first set of translations, learned Muslims became acquainted with Plato’s Demiurge and immortal soul; with Aristotle’s search for science and knowledge of the causes of all the phenomena on earth and in the heavens, culminating in the doctrine of the Unmoved Mover; with Alexander’s cosmology and explanation of providence; with Plotinus’ hierarchy of the principles One, Intellect and Soul; with Proclus’ systematic account of how the One—indisputably identified with Aristotle’s Unmoved Mover—gives rise to the multiplicity of our universe; finally, with John Philoponus’ philosophical arguments for creation. The translation of Proclus’ arguments in favour of the eternity of the cosmos against the Christians, as well as of John Philoponus’ reply to them, also made learned Muslims acquainted with the fact that the Greek philosophers were at odds on some crucial issues. The adaptations which appear in the reworking both of Plotinus’ Enneads (D’Ancona 2006) and of Hyppolitus doxography attributed to Ammonius (Rudolph 1998) show the strategy to deal with this problem typical of the circle of al-Kindi: a strategy which would be successful in the long run. The idea of the basic unity of the Greek philosophical tradition and the twin claim of its intrinsic harmony with the Qur’anic doctrine of the tawhid (divine oneness) will be established by the endorsment, apparent in Kindi’s own works, of the Aristotelian model of the accumulation of knowledge by trial and error (Metaphysics, A and alpha elatton).
His [Kindi’s] treatise On the First Philosophy demonstrates in an elaborate deduction, dependent directly or indirectly on the Platonic Theology of Proclus, the absolute unity of the First Cause. Philosophy is engaged to defend the tawhid, the fundamental tenet of Islamic monotheism, against the temptation of dualism. Concepts provided by the Christian Neoplatonism of Johannes Philoponus and by Arabic excerpts from Plotinus and Proclus (available to him under the name of Aristotle) are used to describe the First Cause as the Creator of the world, the efficient cause of a creatio ex nihilo (ibdaʿ). The perennial hikma of the ancient philosophy is thus shown to give guidance towards unequivocal and irrefutable knowledge, ‘even though they may have fallen short slightly of some of the truth’. (…) Al-Kindi’s creed will be echoed for centuries later by Ibn Rushd in his Decisive Word in defense of philosophy: ‘The truth will not contradict the truth’. (Endress 1990, 6–7)
4. The translations of Hunayn ibn Ishaq, his son Ishaq and their associates: the complete Aristotelian corpus and Alexander of Aphrodisias’s universe
Another group of translators takes the floor a bit later: the one of the Nestorian physician and scientist Hunayn ibn Ishaq (d. 873) (Bergsträsser 1913, 1925; Gabrieli 1924; Meyerhof 1926a, 1926b; Haddad 1974; Strohmaier 1990) his son Ishaq ibn Hunayn (d. 911), and their associates. In addition to the medical corpus of Galen, this group of translators made available in Syriac and/or in Arabic other works by Plato, Aristotle, Theophrastus, some philosophical writings by Galen, as well as works by Alexander of Aphrodisias, Porphyry, perhaps Iamblichus, Themistius, Proclus, and John Philoponus.
Plato. The Arabic translation of the Timaeus made by Ibn al-Bitriq within the circle of al-Kindi was either corrected by Hunayn ibn Ishaq, or superseded by the latter’s translation. The Laws were also translated by Hunayn, but neither translation has come down to us. Hunayn ibn Ishaq is credited also with an exegesis of the Republic. To his son Ishaq is attributed the translation of a dialogue which might be the Sophist, together with a commentary, possibly by Olympiodorus.
Aristotle. The K. al-Fihrist credits Hunayn ibn Ishaq with the translation of the Categories. Hunayn also translated the De Interpretatione into Syriac and Ishaq made the Arabic translation of it. The Prior Analytics were translated into Syriac partly by Hunayn and partly by Ishaq, and into Arabic by a certain Tayadurus. The Posterior Analytics were translated into Syriac, partly by Hunayn and in their entirety by Ishaq. The latter also made a Syriac translation of the Topics, but the translation which has come down to us is the Arabic one, made by Abu ʿUthman al-Dimashqi (books I–VII) and by Ibrahim ibn ʿAbdallah (book VIII). The K. al-Fihrist tentatively attributes to Ishaq a translation of the Rhetoric, but the extant anonymous Arabic version does not bear the features of the translations of this period and has been ascribed to an earlier stage. Ishaq also translated the Physics into Arabic. As for the De Caelo, the K. al-Fihrist mentions a revision made by Hunayn on Ibn al-Bitriq’s version. Hunayn is also the author of a compendium of the Meteorologica (Daiber 1975). The De Generatione et corruptione was translated into Syriac by Hunayn and into Arabic by Ishaq; two other translations are mentioned, by Abu ʿUthman al-Dimashqi and Ibn Bakkus. All the translations mentioned are lost, although not without having left some traces. As for the De Anima, in the K. al-Fihrist we are told that Hunayn translated it into Syriac in its entirety, and that Ishaq made another partial translation, plus a complete translation into Arabic. Ishaq ibn Hunayn also retranslated (or revised) the Metaphysics. He is also credited with the translation into Arabic of the Nicomachean Ethics. In addition to the genuine Aristotelian works, some spuria were also translated by Hunayn and his associates: Hunayn himself possibly translated the Problemata Physica (Filius 2003, 593–98); also the compilation of the so-called De Lapidibus has been ascribed to him (Zonta 2003, 652–54). Ishaq ibn Hunayn made the Arabic version of the De Plantis (Drossaart Lulofs-Poortman 1989; Hugonnard-Roche 2003b, 499–505), and Abu ʿUthman al-Dimashqi is credited with the translation of the De Virtutibus et vitiis.
Theophrastus. The translation of the Metaphysics is attributed to Ishaq ibn Hunayn in one of the extant manuscripts, and linguistic analysis confirms this authorship, even though the K. al-Fihrist attributes the translation to Yahya ibn ʿAdi.
Nicolaus Damascenus. His compilation On the Philosophy of Aristotle was translated into Syriac by Hunayn ibn Ishaq: the extant fragments from the first five books are extant and edited. The commentary on the De Plantis too was translated by Hunayn ibn Ishaq (Drossaart-Lulofs 1965, 16).
Galen. The compendium of Plato’s Timaeus has been translated into Syriac by Hunayn ibn Ishaq and from Syriac into Arabic by Hunayn’s pupil ʿIsa ibn Yahya ibn Ibrahim: the Arabic text has come down to us and forms volume I of the Plato Arabus.
Alexander of Aphrodisias. (i) Commentaries. The commentary by Alexander on Book Lambda of the Metaphysics, lost in Greek together with the rest of Alexander’s commentary beyond book Delta, is said to have been translated into Syriac by Hunayn ibn Ishaq. The Arabic translation, based in all likelihood on this Syriac version, is lost, but several extracts of it survive in Averroes’ commentary on the Metaphysics (Freudenthal 1885; Bouyges 1952, clxxviii-clxxix). (ii) Personal works. Hunayn ibn Ishaq translated Qu. III 3 on sense-perception (Ruland 1978), and his son Ishaq in all likelihood is the translator of Alexander’s De Anima. Two Arabic translations of the treatise On the Principles of the All have come down to us: one by Ishaq ibn Hunayn and the other by Abu ʿUthman al-Dimashqi (Genequand 2001, 31–9; Genequand 2017, 14–16). Even more important for the subsequent developments of falsafa was Ishaq’s Arabic translation of the short treatise On Intellect (see Finnegan 1956; Badawi 1971, 31–42; Goulet-Aouad 1989, 134; Geoffroy 2002).
Porphyry. The Isagoge, already known to some extent through a compendium of Aristotelian logic ascribed to Ibn al-Muqaffaʿ, was translated by Abu ʿUthman al-Dimashqi. This is the only writing by Porphyry whose Arabic translation is extant; other translations are mentioned in the bio-bibliographical sources or otherwise attested by Arab authors. These sources mention an Introduction to the Categorical Syllogisms translated by Abu ʿUthman al-Dimashqi. A commentary on the Categories is recorded in the K. al-Fihrist and served as a source for Ibn Suwar’s “edition” of Hunayn’s translation of the Categories (Elamrani Jamal 1989, 511). A commentary on the Physics, lost in Greek, is also mentioned. A translation of the commentary on the Nicomachean Ethics, lost in Greek, is attributed to Ishaq ibn Hunayn.
Iamblichus. The anonymous translation of a commentary on Pythagoras’ Golden Verses attributed to Iamblichus possibly belongs to this period.
Themistius. Ishaq’s Arabic translation of the paraphrasis of the De Anima, mentioned in the bio-bibliographical sources, is extant and edited (Lyons 1973; see also Browne 1986, 1998 and the overview by Elamrani Jamal 2003, 352–53). The Arabic translation of a Letter by Themistius On Government is attributed to Abu ʿUthman al-Dimashqi (Gutas 1975, 47).
Nemesius of Emesa. The De Natura hominis was translated into Arabic either by Ishaq or by his father Hunayn (see Samir 1986, Zonta 1991, Chase 2005).
Proclus. Ishaq retranslated the Eighteen Arguments on the Eternity of the Cosmos against the Christians.
John Philoponus. Even though there are no compelling reasons to ascribe it to the milieu of Hunayn, the translation of Philoponus’ treatise Against Aristotle on the Eternity of the World might trace back to this period.
Olympiodorus. A paraphrasis of the Meteorologica translated by Hunayn ibn Ishaq and corrected by his son Ishaq (Badawi 1971, 13) has been discovered and edited by ʿA. Badawi (Badawi 1971, 95–190). The text, however, is very different from the one preserved in Greek (Schoonheim 2003, 326).
Together with the translations of the Galenic corpus, Hunayn, Ishaq and other translators associated with them put at the disposal of learned Muslims the Aristotelian corpus in its entirety. This enterprise paved the way to the understanding of Aristotle’s thought as a systematic whole based on the theory of demonstrative science and crowned by the Metaphysics, an understanding which is apparent both in al-Farabi and in Avicenna. The translation of Alexander’s treatises On the Principles of the All and On Intellect helped to shape the metaphysical cosmology and noetics of Medieval Arabic philosophy. A hierarchy of separate, intellectual substances is seen as striving towards Aristotle’s Unmoved Mover, also called the “True One” by both al-Farabi and Avicenna, in a purely Neoplatonic and Kindian vein. In doing so, these separate substances imitate the motionless causality of the First Principle by their eternal circular movement (Pines 1986; Martini Bonadeo 2004). This warrants the regularity of the laws of nature in the sublunar world. The Agent Intellect also belongs to this hierarchy of separate substances: the “light” shed by the Agent Intellect is seen as the condition for the intellect that is a faculty of the human soul, namely the potential intellect, to actually know the intelligibles (Walzer 1970).
In texts in which al-Farabi lays down his program for philosophical education, such as the Enumeration of the Sciences, he explains that metaphysics has three parts. The first one studies beings qua beings; the second studies the principles of the theoretical sciences, such as logic and mathematics; the third studies beings that are neither bodies nor in bodies and discovers that they form a hierarchy leading to the First or One, which gives existence, unity, and truth to all other beings. It also shows how all other beings proceed from the One. (…) The presentation of the third part shows that al-Farabi has abandoned al-Kindi’s view of the One as beyond being and intellect, and that he equates some features of Aristotle’s Prime Mover who is an Intellect with those of the Neoplatonic One. He also distinguishes the First or God from the agent intellect. As the First knows only itself, emanation is necessary and eternally gives rise to the world. Al-Farabi intends to tidy up all the unresolved questions of Aristotle’s Metaphysics and to develop a theological teaching. (Druart 2005, 334)
5. The translations of Abu Bishr Matta ibn Yunus, Yahya ibn ʿAdi and the Baghdad Aristotelians: the “Humanism” of the Buyid Age
Towards the middle of the 10th century, another set of translations into Arabic was produced by the Nestorian Christian Abu Bishr Matta ibn Yunus (d. 940) (Endress 1991a, Martini Bonadeo 2011a) and his pupils. Abu Bishr Matta received his Aristotelian education at the monastery of Mar Mari and came to Baghdad, where in the first decades of the 10th century he had al-Farabi, a Muslim, and Yahya ibn ʿAdi, a Jacobite Christian, among his pupils. He did not know Greek and his translations were made on the basis of the Syriac translations already extant.
Plato. Another translation of the Laws is attributed to Yahya ibn ʿAdi by the ancient sources.
Aristotle. Abu Bishr Matta translated into Arabic the Syriac version of the Posterior Analytics made by Ishaq ibn Hunayn and the Syriac translation of the Poetics. Even though he did not know Greek, the ancient sources mention also a translation by him into Syriac (hence, from Greek) of the Sophistici Elenchi. The sources mention also a partial translation of the De Caelo by him, as well as a translation of the De Generatione et corruptione. Abu Bishr Matta also translated the De Sensu et sensato and Book Lambda of the Metaphysics, together with Alexander of Aphrodisias’ commentary. To his pupil Yahya ibn ʿAdi—who was also a Christian theologian and the author of philosophical treatises—is attributed the Arabic version of the Syriac translation of the Topics made in the previous century by Ishaq ibn Hunayn. Yahya ibn ʿAdi is credited also with the Arabic translation of the Sophistici Elenchi from the Syriac version of Theophilus of Edessa, as well as with that of the Poetics. One of the Christian pupils of Yahya ibn ʿAdi, Abu ʿAli ibn al-Samh, was the “editor” of the ancient translation of the Rhetoric: it is this text which has come down to us. Abu ʿAli ibn Zurʿa, another Christian of this milieu, might have translated an Alexandrian compendium of the Nicomachean Ethics known as Ikhtisar al-Iskandaraniyyin (Summa Alexandrinorum) (Dunlop 1982; Zonta 2003, 197). The 10th century Baghdad Aristotelian Abu l-Faraj ibn al-Tayyib translated the pseudo-Aristotelian De Virtutibus et vitiis and Divisiones (ed. Kellermann-Rost 1965; see also Ferrari 2006, 30), and might be also the translator of the pseudo-Aristotelian Economics (Zonta 2003, 549).
Theophrastus. Ibn al-Nadim, whose information about Yahya ibn ʿAdi is first hand, maintains that the latter translated Theophrastus’ Metaphysics; however, in light of Ishaq’s authorship mentioned above, this claim has been interpreted as a revision of or an editorial work on Ishaq’s translation.
Nicolaus of Damascus. Abu ʿAli ibn Zurʿa, a Christian philosopher of the circle of Yahya ibn ʿAdi, translated into Arabic (in all likelihood from the Syriac version made in the previous century by Hunayn ibn Ishaq) the Compendium of Aristotle’s Philosophy. The same Abu ʿAli ibn Zurʿa began to translate Nicolaus’ compendium of the De Animalibus.
Alexander of Aphrodisias. (i) Commentaries. Abu Bishr Matta translated Alexander’s commentary on the De Generatione et corruptione, lost in Greek but partially preserved in Arabic, as well as the commentary on the Meteorologica. He also made a partial translation of the commentary on the De Caelo. (ii) Personal works. Abu Bishr Matta translated Alexander’s treatise On Providence (which was also known to the circle of al-Kindi [Fazzo-Wiesner 1993]).
Themistius. Themistius’ paraphrasis of the Physics was known in the circle of Abu Bishr Matta (Endress 1977, 35) and some notes which trace back to it are reproduced in the Leiden manuscript mentioned above, which contains the text of the Physics as it was studied in the Baghdad school. In this milieu his paraphrasis of the De Caelo, lost in Greek, was also translated (by Abu Bishr Matta) and revised (by Yahya ibn ʿAdi). Abu Bishr Matta translated from Syriac into Arabic three other works: the paraphrasis of the Posterior Analytics, that of Book Lambda of the Metaphysics, and a writing connected with the Topics.
Proclus. Two works by him were known to Yahya ibn ʿAdi: the De Decem dubitationibus circa providentiam (Endress 1973, 30 and Endress 2012, 1668–9) and the Elementatio Physica (Endress 1973, 27–28 and Endress 2012, 1661).
Simplicius. The commentary on the Categories is mentioned in the bio-bibliographical sources and was known to Ibn Suwar, the “editor” of the so-called “Organon of Baghdad” (see Hugonnard-Roche 1993).
Olympiodorus. Abu Bishr Matta translated into Arabic his commentary on the Meteorologica, in all likelihood from the Syriac version made by Hunayn ibn Ishaq. The commentary on the De Gen. corr., translated also by Ustath at the beginning of the translation movement, was translated by Abu Bishr Matta and revised by Yahya ibn ʿAdi. A commentary of his on the De Anima, unknown in Greek, is also mentioned as extant in Syriac. Finally, an otherwise unknown “Allinus” who wrote a commentary on the Categories might be Elias, the pupil of Olympiodorus; however, other names have been advanced; a “book by Allinus” was translated by Ibn Suwar (Elamrani Jamal 1989, 151–2; Martini Bonadeo 2011c).
Typical of this period was the detailed exegesis of Aristotle’s ipsissima verba made possible by the translations into Arabic of the old versions (often Syriac), as well as of the commentaries. Far away from Baghdad, Avicenna will argue time and again against the interpretations of Aristotle advanced within the context of the Baghdad school of philosophy (Pines 1952; Gutas 2000). Nevertheless, he will continue to rely on the corpus of the Greek sources made available in the previous centuries, not only in the trivial sense of the access they provided to the Greek thought for an Arabic readership, but also in the less evident sense of the philosophical agenda set by the thinkers who assimilated the Greek heritage. Together with the meticulous exegesis of the text of Aristotle, the ideal of carrying on the search for the lore and science of the Ancients, taken as a whole, is a prominent feature of the philosophical circles of this era, apparent both in the production of collections like the Siwan al-hikma (The Repository of Wisdom) and in the ideal of the attainment of happiness through philosophy.
The overriding objective of the Islamic humanists was to revive the ancient philosophic legacy as formative of mind and character. (…) The philosophers considered the ultimate aim of man to be happiness (eudaimonia/saʿada). Happiness, they thought, is achieved through the perfection of virtue, preeminently by the exercise of reason. Attainment of this happiness, or perfection, was said to be something divine, as Aristotle had stated in the Nicomachean Ethics. They depicted this attainment in noetic terms, as the conjoining of man’s (particular) intellect with the divine (universal) intellect. The end of man was conceived as being his self-realization as a god-like being—we may say his ‘deification’. By rising above the perturbations of sense and the disquiet of the emotions to the serene realm of the intellect and the divine, the philosophical man escapes worldly anxiety (qalaq) and reaches tranquillity (sakina). (Kraemer 1992, 6 and 19)
The attitude to the search for happiness in the intellectual life (see Endress 2014) and the endeavour to rely on the heritage of the Ancients as a guidance in search of the “science of the things in their truth (ʿilm al-ashyaʿi bi-haqa’iqiha)” and personal achievement bridges the gap between the beginnings of falsafa in the age of al-Kindi and the developments of the Muslim West, when Averroes would conceive his project of commenting upon the Aristotelian corpus (Endress 1998; 2004).
- DPhA = Dictionnaire des Philosophes Antiques, publié sous la direction de R. Goulet avec une préface de P. Hadot, CNRS Editions, Paris 1989 (vol. I); III, 2000; 2003 (Supplément]; IV (2005); Va (2012); Vb (2012).
- EI2 = Encyclopédie de l’Islam. Nouvelle édition, Brill, Leiden, Maisonneuve & Larose, Paris, various dates.
- EMPh = H. Lagerlund (ed.), Encyclopedia of Medieval Philosophy. Philosophy between 500 and 1500, Springer Science + Business Media, Dordrecht – Heidelberg – London – New York 2011.
- Kitab al-Fihrist = Ibn al-Nadim, Kitab al-Fihrist, mit Anmerkungen hrsg. von G. Flügel, I–II (= Rödiger, Müller), Leipzig 1871–1872; Kitab al-Fihrist li-n-Nadim, ed. R. Tajaddud, Tehran 1971, 19733 = B. Dodge, al-Nadim. The Fihrist, a tenth-Century Survey of Muslim Culture, Columbia University Press, New York-London 1970.
- Abu Rida, 1950, Rasa’il al-Kindi al-falsafiyya, haqqaqaha wa-akhrajaha maʿa muqaddima, M. ʿA. Abu Rida, Dar al- fikr al-ʿarabi, I–II, Cairo 1950–53 (Cairo 1978).
- Adamson, P., 2003, The Arabic Plotinus. A Philosophical study of the Theology of Aristotle, Duckworth, London.
- –––, 2006, Al-Kindi, Oxford University Press, Oxford.
- –––, 2007, “Porphyrius Arabus on Nature and Art: Fragment 463F Smith in Context”, in G. Karamanolis and A. Sheppard (eds.), Studies in Porphyry, Bulletin of the Institute of Classical Studies (suppl.), Institute of Classical Studies, London, 141–63.
- –––, 2011, “Al-Kindi, Abu Yusuf Yaʿqub ibn Ishaq”, in EMPh, 672–6.
- Al-Ahwani, A.F., 1952, Isagugi maʿa hayat Furfuriyyus wa-falsafatihi, Isa al-Babi, Cairo.
- –––, 1962, Kitab al-nafs li-Aristutalis, Dar Ihya’ al-Kutub al-ʿArabiyya, Cairo.
- Al-Qadi, W., 1981, “Kitab Siwan al-hikma: Structure, Composition, Authorship and Sources”, Der Islam, 58, 87–124.
- Altheim, F. and R. Stiehl, 1962, “New Fragments of Greek Philosophers. II. Porphyry in Arabic and Syriac translations”, East and West, 13, 3–15.
- Altmann, A. and S.M. Stern, 1958, Isaac Israeli. A Neoplatonic Philosopher of the Early Tenth Century. His works translated with comments and an outline of his philosophy, Oxford University Press, Oxford (repr. Greenwood Press, Westport 1979).
- Anawati, G. Ch., 1956, “Un fragment perdu du De Aeternitate mundi de Proclus”, in Mélanges Diès, repr. in Études de Philosophie Musulmane, Vrin, Paris 1974, 224–27.
- Aouad, M., 1989a, “Le De Pomo”, in DPhA, I, 539–41.
- –––, 1989b, “La Théologie d’Aristote et autres textes du Plotinus Arabus”, in DPhA, I, 541–90.
- –––, 1989c, “La Rhétorique. Tradition syriaque et arabe”, in DPhA, I, 455–72.
- Arberry A. J., 1955, “Some Plato in an Arabic Epitome”, The Islamic Quarterly, 2, 86–99.
- Arnzen, R., 1998, Aristoteles’ De Anima. Eine verlorene spätantike Paraphrase in arabischer und persischer Überlieferung. Arabischer text nebst Kommentar, Quellengeschichtlichen Studien und Glossaren, Brill, Leiden, New York, Köln.
- –––, 2003, De Anima. Paraphrase arabe anonyme, in DPhA, Suppl., 359–65.
- –––, 2009, “Platon. Arabisches Mittelalter”, in C. Horn, J. Muüller and J. Soöder (eds.), Platon Handbuch. Leben, Werk, Wirkung, Metzler, Stuttgart, 439–45.
- –––, 2011, “Plato. Arabic”, in EMPh, 1012–16.
- –––, 2012, “Plato’s Timaeus in the Arabic Tradition. Legend – Testimonies – Fragments”, in F. Celia and A. Ulacco (eds.), Il Timeo. Esegesi greche, arabe, latine, Pisa University Press, Pisa, 181–267.
- Badawi, A., 1954, Aristutalis fi al-nafs. Maktabat al-Nahda al-Misriyya, Cairo.
- –––, 1955a, Aflutin ʿinda l-ʿarab. Plotinus apud Arabes. Theologia Aristotelis et fragmenta quae supersunt, Maktabat al-Nahda al-Misriyya, Cairo (repr. Dar al-Nahda al-Misriyya, Cairo 1966).
- –––, 1955b, Al-Aflatuniyya al-muhdatha ʿind al-ʿArab, Maktabat al-Nahda al-Misriyya, Cairo (repr. Wikalat al-Matbuʿa, al-Kuwayt 1977).
- –––, 1961, Aristutalis fi al-Samaʿ wa-l-Athar al-ʿulwiyya, Maktabat al-Nahda al-Misriyya, Cairo.
- –––, 1966, Aflutin ʿinda l-ʿArab. Plotinus apud Arabes. Theologia Aristotelis et fragmenta quae supersunt, Dar al-Nahda al-Misriyya, Cairo.
- –––, 1968, La transmission de la philosophie grecque au monde arabe, Vrin, Paris.
- –––, 1971, Commentaires sur Aristote perdus en grec et autres épîtres, publiés et annotés, El Machreq Editeurs, Beyrouth.
- –––, 1978, al-Akhlaq, ta’lif Aristutalis, tarjama Ishaq ibn Hunayn, Wikalat al-Matbuʿa, al-Kuwayt.
- –––, 1980, Mantiq Aristu. I–III. K. al-Maqulat, Wikalat al-Matbuʿa, Dar al-qalam, al-Kuwayt, Beirut (1st edition Dar al-kutub al-Misriyya, Cairo 1948–52).
- –––, 1984, Aristutalis. Al-Tabiʿa. Tarjama Ishaq ibn Hunayn, I–II, al-Hay’a al-Misriyya al-ʿAmma li-l-Kitab, Cairo.
- Baffioni, C., 1982, Atomismo e antiatomismo nel pensiero islamico, Istituto Orientale, Napoli.
- –––, 2001, “Frammenti e testimonianze platoniche nelle Rasa’il degli Ikhwan al-Safa’ ”, in G. Fiaccadori (ed.), Autori classici in lingue del vicino e medio Oriente, Istituto poligrafico e zecca dello Stato, Roma, 163–78.
- –––, 2011, “Presocratics in the Arab World”, in EMPh, 1073–6.
- Balty-Guesdon, M.G., 1992, “Le Bayt al-Hikma”, Arabica, 39, 131–50.
- Bardenhewer, O., 1882, Die pseudo-aristotelische Schrift ueber das reine Gute bekannt unter dem Namen Liber de causis. Freiburg im Breisgau (repr. Frankfurt a.M. 1961).
- Baumstark, A., 1900, Aristoteles bei den Syrern vom 5. bis 8. Jahrhunderts. Syrische Texte herausgegeben, übersetzt und untersucht. 1. (einziger) Band. Syrisch-arabische Biographien des Aristoteles. Syrische Kommentare zur ΕΙΣΑΓΩΓΗ des Porphyrios, Neudruck der Ausgabe Leipzig, Scientia Verlag, Aachen 1975.
- –––, 1905, “Griechische Philosophen und ihre Lehren in syrischer Ueberlieferung. Abschnitte aus Theodoros’ bar Koni Buch der Scholien”, Oriens Christianus, 5, 1–25.
- Bergsträsser, G., 1913, Hunayn ibn Ishak und seine Schule: Sprach- und literaturgeschichtliche Untersuchungen zu den arabischen Hippokrates- und Galen-Übersetzungen, Brill, Leiden.
- –––, 1925, “Hunayn ibn Ishaq über die syrischen und arabischen Galen-Übersetzungen, zum ersten Mal herausgegeben und übersetzt”, Abhandlungen für die Kunde des Morgenländes.
- –––, 1932, “Neue Materialen zu Hunayn ibn Ishaqs Galen-Bibliographie”, Abhandlungen für die Kunde des Morgenländes.
- Bertolacci, A., 2006, The Reception of Aristotle’s Metaphysics in Avicenna’s Kitab al-Shifa’. A Milestone of Western Metaphysical Thought, Brill, Leiden.
- Bettiolo, P., 2003, “Dei casi della vita, della pietà e del buon nome. Intorno ai ʿdetti’ siriaci di Menandro”, in M.-S. Funghi (ed.), Aspetti di letteratura gnomica nel mondo antico I, Olschki, Firenze, 83–103.
- –––, 2005, “Scuole e ambienti intellettuali nelle chiese di Siria”, in C. D’Ancona (ed.), Storia della filosofia nell’Islam medievale, Einaudi, Torino, 48–100.
- Biesterfeldt H. H., 2011a, “Alexandrian Tradition into Arabic: medicine”, in EMPh, 64–66.
- –––, 2011b, “Medicine in the Arab World”, in EMPh, 742–6.
- Black, D.L., 1990, Logic and Aristotle’s Rhetoric and Poetics in Medieval Arabic Philosophy, Brill, Leiden.
- Boudon, 2000, V. Boudon, “Galien de Pergame”, in DPhA, III, 440–66.
- Bouyges, 1938–48, M. Bouyges, Averroès. Tafsir Ma baʿd at-Tabiʿat (“Grand Commentaire” de la Métaphysique), Imprimerie Catholique, Beirut.
- –––, 1952, Averroès. Tafsir Ma baʿd at-Tabiʿat (“Grand Commentaire” de la Métaphysique). Notice, Imprimerie Catholique, Beirut.
- Brague, R., 1999, Thémistius. Paraphrase de la Métaphysique d’Aristote (livre Lambda), traduit de l’hébreu et de l’arabe, int., notes et indices par R. Brague, Vrin, Paris.
- Brock, S., 1977, “Greek into Syriac and Syriac into Greek”, Journal of the Syriac Academy, 3, 406–22 (repr. in Syriac Perspectives in Late Antiquity, Variorum, Aldershot 1984).
- –––, 1982, “From Antagonism to Assimilation: Syriac Attitudes to Greek Learning”, in N. Garsoïan, T. Mathews, R. Thompson (eds), East of Byzantium: Syria and Armenia in the Formative Period, Dumbarton Oaks, Washington, 17–34 (repr. in Syriac Perspectives in Late Antiquity).
- –––, 1993, “The Syriac commentary tradition”, in Ch. Burnett (ed.), Glosses and Commentaries on Aristotelian Logical Texts. The Syriac, Arabic and Medieval Latin Traditions, The Warburg Institute, London, 3–18 (repr. in From Ephrem to Romanos. Interactions between Syriac and Greek in Late Antiquity, Variorum, Ashgate 1999).
- –––, 1994, “Greek and Syriac in Late Antique Syria”, in A. K. Bowman and G. Woolf (eds.), Literacy and Power in the Ancient World, Cambridge University Press, Cambridge, 149–60, 234–35 (repr. in From Ephrem to Romanos).
- –––, 1999, “Two letters of the Patriarch Timothy from the late eighth century on translations from Greek”, Arabic Sciences and Philosophy, 9, 233–46.
- –––, 2003, “Syriac Translations of Greek Popular Philosophy”, in P. Bruns (ed.) Von Athen nach Bagdad. Zur Rezeption griechischer Philosophie von der Spätantike bis zum Islam, Borengässer, Bonn, 9–28.
- –––, 2014, “An Abbreviated Syriac Version of Ps.-Aristotle, De Virtutibus et vitiis and Divisiones”, in E. Coda, C. Martini Bonadeo (ed.), De l’Antiquité tardive au Moyen Age. Études de logique aristotélicienne et de philosophie grecque, syriaque, arabe et latine offertes à Henri Hugonnard-Roche, Vrin, Paris, 91–112.
- Brown V., 2002, “Avicenna and the Christian Philosophers in Baghdad”, in S. M. Stern, A. Hourani, V. Brown (eds.), Islamic Philosophy and the Classical Tradition. Essays presented by his friends and pupils to Richard Walzer, Cassirer, Oxford 1972, 35–48.
- Browne G.M., 1986, “Ad Themistium Arabum”, Illinois Classical Studies, 11, 223–45.
- Browne G.M., 1998, “Ad Themistium Arabum II”, Illinois Classical Studies, 23, 121–6.
- Brugman, J. and H.J. Drossaart Lulofs, 1971, Aristotle. Generation of the Animals. The Arabic translation commonly ascribed to Yahya ibn al-Bitriq, Brill, Leiden.
- Cacouros M., 2003, “Le traité pseudo-aristotélicien De Virtutibus et vitiis”, in DPhA, Suppl., 506–46.
- Chase M., 2005, “Nemésius d’Emèse. La tradition arabe”, in DPhA, IV, 652–4.
- Coda E., 2011, “Themistius, Arabic”, in EMPh, 1260–66.
- –––, 2012, “Alexander of Aphrodisias in Themistius’ Paraphrase of the De Caelo”, Studia graeco-arabica, 2, 355–71.
- –––, 2017,“Il Libro degli animali (K. al-hayawan). Materiali di studio sulla zoologia aristotelica nel Medioevo arabo ed ebraico” in M. Sassi (ed.), La zoologia di Aristotele e la sua ricezione dall’età ellenistica e romana alle culture medievali, Pisa University Press, Pisa, 205–35.
- Contini, R., 2001, “Le scienze del linguaggio”, in Storia della scienza, vol. IV, sez. I. La scienza siriaca. Coordinamento scientifico di J. Teixidor, collaborazione di R. Contini, Istituto della Enciclopedia Italiana, Roma, 26–36.
- Cooperson, M., 2005, Al-Ma’mun, Oneworld, Oxford.
- Cottrell E., 2008, “Notes sur quelques-uns des témoignages médiévaux relatifs à l’Histoire philosophique (ἡ φιλόσοφος ἱστορία) de Porphyre”, in A. Akasoy and W. Raven (eds.), Islamic Thought in the Middle Ages. Studies in Text, Transmission and Translation, in Honour of Hans Daiber, Brill, Leiden – Boston, 523–55.
- Crubellier M., 1992, “La version arabe de la Métaphysique de Théophraste et l’établissement du texte grec”, Revue d’Histoire des Textes, 22, 19–45.
- Daiber, H., 1975, Ein Kompendium der aristotelischen Meteorologie in der Fassung des Hunayn ibn Ishaq, Brill, Leiden.
- –––, 1980, Aetius Arabus. Die Vorsokratiker in arabischer Überlieferung, F. Steiner Verlag, Wiesbaden.
- –––, 1985, “A Survey on Theophrastean Texts and Ideas in Arabic”, in W. W. Fortenbaugh, P. M. Huby, and A. A. Long (eds.), Theophrastus of Eresus. On his Life and Work, Transaction Books, New Brunswick – Oxford, 103–14.
- –––, 1994, “Hellenistisch-kaiserzeitliche Doxographie und philosophische Synkretismus in islamischer Zeit”, in W. Haase, H. Temporini (eds), Aufstieg und Niedergang der Römischen Welt, II 36.7, de Gruyter, Berlin – New York, 4974–92.
- –––, 1995, Neuplatonische Pythagorica in arabischem Gewande. Der Kommentar des Iamblichus zu den Carmina Aurea. Ein verlorener griechischer Text in arabischer Überlieferung, North-Holland, Amsterdam, New York, Oxford - Tokyo.
- –––, 1997, “Salient trends of the Arabic Aristotle”, in The Ancient Tradition in Christian and Islamic Hellenism. Studies on the Transmission of Greek Philosophy and Sciences dedicated to H.J. Drossaart Lulofs on his ninetieth birthday, ed. by G. Endress and R. Kruk, Leiden, 29–41.
- D’Ancona, C., 2001, “Pseudo-Theology of Aristotle, Chapter I: Structure and Composition”, Oriens, 36, 78–112.
- D’Ancona, C., et al., 2003, Plotino. La discesa dell’anima nei corpi (Enn. IV 8. Plotiniana Arabica (pseudo-Teologia di Aristotele, capitoli 1 e 7; «Detti del Sapiente Greco»), a cura di C. D’Ancona, Il Poligrafo, Padova.
- –––, 2006, “The Topic of the ‘Harmony Between Plato and Aristotle’: Some Examples in Early Arabic Philosophy”, in A. Speer, L. Wegener (eds), Wissen über Grenzen. Arabisches Wissen und lateinisches Mittelalter, de Gruyter, Berlin, New York, 379–405.
- –––, 2008, “Avicenna and the Metaphysics: Reflections about a New Approach”, International Journal of the Classical Tradition, 15, 457–65.
- –––, 2011a, “Plotinus, Arabic”, in EMPh, 1030–38.
- –––, 2011b, “La Teologia neoplatonica di ‘Aristotele’ e gli inizi della filosofia arabo-musulmana”, in R. Goulet and U. Rudolph (eds.), Entre Orient et Occident. la philosophie et la science gréco-romaines dans le monde arabe, 57 Entretiens sur l’Antiquité Classique, Fondation Hardt, Vandoeuvres – Genève, 135–90.
- –––, 2011c, “Porphyry, Arabic”, in EMPh, 1056–62.
- –––, 2011d, “Translations from Greek into Arabic”, in EMPh, 1318–33.
- –––, 2016a, “Greek into Arabic”, in The Encyclopaedia of Islam Three, Brill, Leiden-Boston, 116–34.
- –––, 2016b, “Emanation”, in The Encyclopaedia of Islam Three, Brill, Leiden-Boston, 81–90.
- –––, 2017, “The Theology Attributed to Aristotle: Sources, Structure, Influence”, in Kh. El-Rouayheb, S. Schmidtke (eds.), The Oxford Handbook of Islamic Philosophy, Oxford University Press, Oxford, 8–29.
- D’Ancona, C. and R.C. Taylor, 2003, “Le Liber de Causis”, in DPhA Suppl., 599–647.
- Danish Pazuh, M.N.T., 1978, Mantiq Ibn al-Muqaffaʿ, Anjuman-i Shahanshahi Falsafah-i Tihran, Tehran.
- Davidson, H.A., 1979, “The Principle that a finite body can contain only a finite power”, in S. Stein and R. Loewe (eds.), Studies in Jewish Religious and Intellectual History presented to Alexander Altmann, The University of Alabama Press, Alabama, 75–92.
- –––, 1987, Proofs for Eternity, Creation and the Existence of God in Medieval Islamic and Jewish Philosophy, Oxford University Press, New York, Oxford.
- De Smet D., 1998, Empedocles Arabus. Une lecture néoplatonicienne tardive. Koninklijke Academie voor Wetenschappen, letteren en Schone Kunsten van Belgie, Brussels.
- Dhanani A., 1994, The Physical Theory of Kalam, Atoms, Space and Void in Basrian Mutazilite Cosmology, Brill, Leiden.
- Di Branco M., 2012, “Un’istituzione sasanide? Il Bayt al-hikma e il movimento di traduzione”, Studia graeco-arabica, 2, 255–63.
- Di Martino, C., 2003, “Parva naturalia. Tradition arabe”, in DPhA Suppl., 375–78.
- Dieterici, F., 1882, Die sogenannte Theologie des Aristoteles aus arabischen Handschriften zum ersten Mal herausgegeben, J. C. Hinrichs’sche Buchhandlung, Leipzig (repr. Rodopi, Amsterdam 1965).
- Drossaart-Lulofs, H.-J., 1965, Nicolaus Damascenus on the Philosophy of Aristotle. Fragments from the first five books translated from the Syriac with an introduction and the commentary, Brill, Leiden (repr. 1969).
- Drossaart Lulofs, H.-J. and E.L.J. Poortman, 1989, Nicolaus Damascenus De Plantis. Five Translations, North-Holland Publishing Company, Amsterdam.
- Dunlop, D.M., 1959, “The translations of al-Bitriq and Yahya (Yuhanna) b. al-Bitriq”, Journal of the Royal Asiatic Society, 1959, 140–50.
- –––, 1982, “The Arabic tradition of the Summa Alexandrinorum”, Archives d’Histoire doctrinale et littéraire du Moyen Age, 49, 253–63.
- El-Rouayheb Kh., 2011, “Logic in the Arabic and Islamic World”, in EMPh, 686–92.
- Elamrani Jamal, 1989, “Organon. Tradition syriaque et arabe. Les Catégories”, in DPhA, I, 507–13.
- –––, 2003, “De Anima. Tradition arabe”, in DPhA Suppl., 346–58.
- Endress, G., 1966, Die arabischen Übersetzungen von Aristoteles’ Schrift De Caelo, Inaugural-Dissertation, Bildstelle der J. W. Goethe Universität, Frankfurt a. M.
- –––, 1973, Proclus Arabus. Zwanzig Abschnitte aus der Institutio Theologica in arabischer Übersetzung, Imprimerie Catholique, Wiesbaden-Beirut.
- –––, 1977, The Works of Yahya ibn ʿAdi. An Analytical Inventory, Reichert, Wiesbaden.
- –––, 1986, “Grammatik und Logik. Arabische Philologie und griechische Philosophie im Widerstreit”, in Sprachphilosophie in Antike und Mittelalter, hsg. von B. Mojsisch, Amsterdam, 163–299.
- –––, 1987, “Die wissenschaftliche Literatur”, in Grundriss der Arabischen Philologie. II. Literaturwissenschaft, hrsg. von H. Gätje, Reichert, Wiesbaden, 400–530.
- –––, 1990, “The Defense of Reason. The Plea for Philosophy in the Religious Community”, Zeitschrift für Geschichte der Arabisch-Islamischen Wissenschaften, 6, 1–49.
- –––, 1991, Matta ibn Yunus, in EI2 VI, 844–46.
- –––, 1992, “Die wissenschaftliche Literatur”, in Grundriss der Arabischen Philologie. III. Supplement, hrsg. von W. Fischer, Reichert, Wiesbaden, 3–152.
- –––, 1994, “Al-Kindi über die Wiedererinnerung der Seele. Arabischer Platonismus und die Legitimation der Wissenschaften im Islam”, Oriens, 34, 174–221.
- –––, 1995a, “Averroes’ De caelo. Ibn Rushd’s Cosmology in his commentaries on Aristotle’s On the Heavens”, Arabic Sciences and Philosophy, 5, 9–49.
- –––, 1995b, “Saʿid b. Yaʿqub al-Dimashqi”, in EI2 VIII, 858–59.
- –––, 1997a, “The Circle of al-Kindi. Early Arabic Translations from the Greek and the Rise of Islamic Philosophy”, in The Ancient Tradition in Christian and Islamic Hellenism. Studies on the Transmission of Greek Philosophy and Sciences dedicated to H.J. Drossaart Lulofs on his ninetieth birthday, ed. by G. Endress and R. Kruk, CNWS Research, Leiden, 43–76.
- –––, 1997b, “L’Aristote Arabe. Réception, autorité et transformation du Premier Maître”, Medioevo. Rivista di storia della filosofia medievale, 23, 1–42.
- –––, 1998, “Le projet d’Averroès: constitution, réception et édition du corpus des œuvres d’Ibn Rushd”, in G. Endress, J. A. Aertsen (eds), Averroes and the Aristotelian Tradition. Sources, Constitution and Reception of the Philosophy of Ibn Rushd (1126–1198). Proceedings of the Fourth Symposium Averroicum (Cologne, 1996), Brill, Leiden, Boston, Köln.
- –––, 2002, “Alexander Arabus on the First Cause. Aristotle’s First Mover in an Arabic Treatise attributed to Alexander of Aphrodisias”, in C. D’Ancona, G. Serra (eds.), Aristotele e Alessandro di Afrodisia nella tradizione araba, Il Poligrafo, Padova, 19–74.
- –––, 2004, “If God will grant me life. Averroes the Philosopher: Studies on the History of His Development”, Documenti e Studi sulla tradizione filosofica medievale, 15, 227–53.
- –––, 2006, “Organizing Scientific Knowledge: Intellectual Traditions and Encyclopaedias of the Rational Sciences in Arabic Islamic Hellenism”, in G. Endress (ed.), Organizing Knowledge. Encyclopaedic Activities in the Pre-Eighteenth Century Islamic World, Brill, Leiden, 103–33.
- –––, 2007, “Building the Library of Arabic Philosophy. Platonism and Aristotelianism in the Sources of al-Kindi”, in C. D’Ancona (ed.), The Libraries of the Neoplatonists. Proceedings of the Meeting of the European Science Foundation Network “Late Antiquity and Arabic Thought”, Brill, Leiden, 319–50.
- –––, 2012, “Proclus de Lycie. Oeuvres transmises par la tradition arabe”, in DPhA, Vb, 1657–74.
- –––, 2012a,“Platonizing Aristotle. The Concept of ‘Spiritual’ (ruhani) as a Keyword of the Neoplatonic Strand in Early Arabic Aristotelianism”, Studia graeco-arabica, 2, 265–79.
- –––, 2012b, “Höfische Stil und wissenschaftliche Rhetorik. Al-Kindi als Epistolograph”, in F. Opwis & D. Reisman (eds.), Islamic Philosophy, Science, Culture, and Religion. Studies in Honor of Dimitri Gutas, Brill, Leiden-Boston, 289–306.
- –––, 2014, “Platonic Ethics and the Aristotelian Encyclopaedia. The Arabic Aristotle and his Readers in Court and Chancellery”, in E. Coda, C. Martini Bonadeo (eds.), De l’Antiquité tardive au Moyen Age. Études de logique aristotélicienne et de philosophie grecque, syriaque, arabe et latine offertes à Henri Hugonnard-Roche, Vrin, Paris, 465–89.
- –––, 2015, “Theology as a Rational Science: Aristotelian Philosophy, the Christian Trinity and Islamic Monotheism in the thought of Yahya ibn ‘Adi”, in D. Janos (ed.), Ideas in Motion in Baghdad and Beyond: Philosophical and Theological Exchanges Between Christians and Muslims in the Third/Ninth and Fourth/Tenth Centuries, Brill, Leiden, 221–52.
- ––– and P. Adamson, “Abu Yusuf al-Kindi”, in U. Rudolph, R. Würsch (eds.), 2012, Philosophie in der islamischen Welt. Band I. 8.-10. Jahrhundert, Schwabe, Basel, 92–147.
- Fazzo, S., 2003, “Alexandros d’Aphrodisias. Supplément”, in DPhA Suppl., 64–70.
- Fazzo, S. and H. Wiesner, 1993, “Alexander of Aphrodisias in the Kindi circle and in al-Kindi’s cosmology” Arabic Sciences and Philosophy, 3, 119–53.
- Ferrari, C., 2006, Der Kategorienkommentar von Abu l-Faraj ʿAbdallah ibn at-Tayyib. Text und Untersuchungen, Brill, Leiden, Boston.
- Filius, L.S., 2003, “La tradition orientale des Problemata Physica”, in DPhA, Suppl., 593–98.
- Finnegan, J., 1956, “Texte arabe du Περὶ νοῦ d’Alexandre d’Aphrodise”, Mélanges de l’Université Saint-Joseph, 33, 157–202.
- Fiori E., 2011, “Translations form Greek into Syriac”, in EMPh, 1333–5.
- Frank R. M., 1958, “Some Fragments of Ishaq’s Translation of the De Anima”, Cahiers de Byrsa, 8 (1958–9), 231–51, repr. in D. Gutas (ed.), Philosophy, Theology and Mysticism in Medieval Islam. Texts and Studies on the Development and History of Kalam, vol. 1, Ashgate: Aldershot & Burlington 2006.
- –––, 1979, “Kalam and Philosophy, a perspective from one problem”, in P. Morewedge (ed.), Islamic Philosophical Theology, SUNY Press, Albany, 71–95.
- –––, 1992, “The Science of Kalam”, Arabic Sciences and Philosophy, 2, 7–37.
- Freudenthal G., 2005, “L’Introduction arithmétique de Nicomaque de Gérase dans les traditions syriaque, arabe et hébraïque”, in DPhA, IV, 690–94.
- Freudenthal, J., 1885, Die durch Averroes erhaltenen Fragmente Alexanders zur Metaphysik des Aristoteles untersucht und übersetzt von J. F. mit Beiträgen zur Erläuterung des arabischen Textes von S. Fränkel, Berlin.
- Furlani, G., 1916, “Frammenti di una versione siriaca del commento di pseudo-Olimpiodoro alle Categorie d’Aristotele”, Rivista degli Studi Orientali, 7, 131–63.
- –––, 1921–22, “Sull’introduzione di Atanasio di Baladh alla logica e sillogistica aristotelica”, Atti del Reale Istituto Veneto di Scienze, Lettere e Arti, 81, 2, 635–44.
- –––, 1922a, “Uno scolio d’Eusebio d’Alessandria alle Categorie d’Aristotele in versione siriaca”, Rivista Trimestrale di Studi Filosofici e Religiosi, 3(1), 1–14.
- –––, 1922b, “Sul trattato di Sergio di Resh’ayna circa le categorie”, Rivista Trimestrale di Studi Filosofici e Religiosi, 3(2), 3–22.
- –––, 1922c, “Una risalah di al-Kindi sull’anima”, Rivista Trimestrale di Studi Filosofici e Religiosi, 3, 50–63.
- –––, 1923a, “La versione e il commento di Giorgio delle Nazioni all’Organo aristotelico”, Studi Italiani di Filologia Classica, 3, 305–33.
- –––, 1923b, “Il trattato di Sergio di Resh’ayna sull’universo” Rivista Trimestrale di Studi Filosofici e Religiosi, 4, 1, 135–72.
- –––, 1928, “L’Encheiridion di Giacomo d’Edessa nel testo siriaco”, Rendiconti della Regia Accademia Nazionale dei Lincei. Classe di Scienze Morali, Storiche, Filologiche, serie VI, 4, 222–49.
- –––, 1933, “Le Categorie e gli Ermeneutici di Aristotele nella versione siriaca di Giorgio delle Nazioni”, Atti della Regia Accademia Nazionale dei Lincei. Memorie della Classe di Scienze Morali, Storiche e Filologiche, serie VI, 5.1, 1–68.
- Gabrieli, G., 1912, “Nota bio-bibliografica su Qusta ibn Luqa”, Rendiconti della Reale Accademia dei Lincei. Classe di scienze morali, storiche e filologiche, serie V, 21, 341–82.
- Gabrieli, F., 1924, “Hunayn ibn Ishaq”, Isis, 6, 282–92.
- –––, 1932, “L’opera di Ibn al-Muqaffaʿ ”, Rivista degli Studi Orientali, 13, 197–247.
- Gannagé, E., 2005, Alexander of Aphrodisias. On Aristotle On Coming-to-Be and Perishing, Duckworth, London.
- –––, 2012, “Philopon (Jean –). Tradition arabe”, in DPhA, Va, 503–63.
- Gätje, 1971, Studien zur Überlieferung der aristotelischen Psychologie im Islam, C. Winter, Heidelberg.
- Genequand, Ch., 1984, “Quelques aspects de l’idée de nature, d’Aristote à al- Ghazâlî,” Revue de théologie et de philosophie, 116: 105–29.
- –––, 1987–88, “Platonism and Hermetism in al-Kindi’s Fi al-nafs”, Zeitschrift für Geschichte der Arabisch-Islamischen Wissenschaften, 4, 1–18.
- –––, 2001, Alexander of Aphrodisias On the Cosmos, Brill, Leiden, Boston, Köln.
- –––, 2011, “Alexander of Aphrodisias and Arabic Aristotelianism”, in EMPh, 60–62.
- –––, 2017, Alexandre d’Aphrodise. Les Principes du Tout selon la doctrine d’Aristote. Introduction, texte arabe, traduction et commentaire, Vrin, Paris.
- Geoffroy, M., 2002, “La tradition arabe du Περὶ νοῦ d’Alexandre d’Aphrodise et les origines de la théorie farabienne des quatre degrés de l’intellect”, in C. D’Ancona - G. Serra (eds), Aristotele e Alessandro di Afrodisia nella tradizione araba, Il Poligrafo, Padova, 191–231.
- –––, 2011, “Aristotle, Arabic”, in EMPh, 105–16.
- Georr, Kh., 1948, Les Catégories d’Aristote dans leurs versions syro-arabes. Édition de textes précédée d’une étude historique et critique et suivie d’un vocabulaire technique, Institut Français de Damas, Beyrouth.
- Giannakis, E., 1993, “The Structure of Abu l-Husayn al-Basri’s Copy of Aristotle’s Physics”, Zeitschrift fur Geschichte der arabisch-islamischen Wissenschaften, 8, 251–58.
- –––, 1995–96, “Fragments from Alexander’s Lost Commentary on Aristotle’s Physics”, Zeitschrift für Geschichte der arabisch-islamischen Wissenschaften, 10, 157–185.
- –––, 2002–3, “The Quotations from John Philoponus’ De Aeternitate mundi contra Proclum in al-Biruni’s India”, Zeitschrift für Geschichte der arabisch-islamischen Wissenschaften, 15, 185–95.
- –––, 2011, “Philoponus, Arabic”, in EMPh, 975–8.
- Ghorab A. A., 1972, “The Greek Commentators on Aristotle quoted in al-ʿAmiri’s as-Saʿada wa-l-isʿad”, in S. M. Stern, A. Hourani, and V. Brown (eds.), Islamic Philosophy and the Classical Tradition. Essays presented by his friends and pupils to Richard Walzer, Cassirer, Oxford, 77–88.
- Goulet-Aouad, 1989, “Alexandros d’Aphrodisias”, in DPhA, I, 125–39.
- Griffel F., 2011, “Kalam”, in EMPh, 665–72.
- Grignaschi, M., 1965–66, “Les Rasa’il Aristatalisa ʿala-l-Iskandar de Salim Abu-l-ʿAla’ et l’activité culturelle à l’époque omayyade”, Bulletin d’Études Orientales, 19, 7–83.
- –––, 1967, “Le roman épistolaire classique conservé dans la version arabe de Salim Abu-l-ʿAla’ ”, Le Muséon, 80, 211–64.
- –––, 1976, “L’origine et les métamorphoses du Sirr al-asrar”, Archives d’Histoire doctrinale et littéraire du Moyen Age, 43, 7–112.
- Gutas, 1975, Greek Wisdom Literature in Arabic Translation. A Study of Graeco-Arabic Gnomologia, American Oriental Society, New Haven.
- –––, 1981, “Classical Arabic Wisdom Literature: Nature and Scope”, Journal of the American Oriental Society, 101, 49–86.
- –––, 1983, “Paul the Persian on the Classification of the Parts of Aristotle’s Philosophy: a Milestone between Alexandria and Bagdad”, Der Islam, 60, 231–67.
- –––, 1985, “The Life, Works and Sayings of Theophrastus in the Arabic Tradition”, in W. W. Fortenbaugh, P. M. Huby, and A. A. Long (eds.), Theophrastus of Eresus. On his Life and Work, Transaction Books, New Brunswick – Oxford, 63–102.
- –––, 1988a, “Plato’s Symposion in the Arabic tradition”, Oriens, 31, 36–60.
- –––, 1988b, Avicenna and the Aristotelian Tradition. Introduction to Reading Avicenna’s Philosophical Works, Brill, Leiden – New York – Kobenhavn – Koeln.
- –––, 1992, Theophrastus of Eresus: sources for his life, writings thought and influence, ed. and transl. by W. W. Fortenbaugh, P. M. Huby, R. W. Sharples (Greek and Latin) and D. Gutas (Arabic), Brill, Leiden.
- –––, 1994, Pre-Plotinian Philosophy in Arabic (other than Platonism and Aristotelianism) A Review of the Sources, in W. Haase and H. Temporini (eds.), Aufstieg und Niedergang der Römischen Welt, II 36.7, de Gruyter, Berlin – New York, 4939–73.
- –––, 1998, Greek Thought, Arabic Culture. The Graeco-Arabic Translation Movement in Baghdad and Early ʿAbbasid Society (2nd-4th / 8th-10th centuries), Routledge, London.
- –––, 1999, “Averroes on Theophrastus through Themistius”, in G. Endress and J. Aertsen (eds.), Averroes and the Aristotelian Tradition. Sources, Constitution and Reception of the Philosophy of Ibn Rushd (1126–1198), Proceedings of the Fourth Symposium Averroicum, Brill, Leiden, 125–44.
- –––, 2000, “Avicenna’s Eastern (‘Oriental’) Philosophy. Nature, Contents, Transmission”, Arabic Sciences and Philosophy, 10, 159–80.
- –––, 2005, “The Logic of Theology (kalam) in Avicenna”, in D. Perler, U. Rudolph (eds.), Logik und Theologie. Das Organon im arabischen und im lateinischen Mittelalter, Brill, Leiden, Boston, 59–72.
- –––, 2006, “The Greek and Persian Background of Early Arabic Encyclopedism”, in G. Endress (ed.), Organizing Knowledge. Encyclopaedic Activities in the Pre-Eighteenth Century Islamic World, Brill, Leiden, 91–101.
- –––, 2009, “On Graeco-Arabic Epistolary Novels”, Middle Eastern Literatures, 12, 59–70.
- –––, 2010, Theophrastus On First Principles (known as Metaphysics). Greek Text and Medieval Arabic Translation, edited and translated with Introduction, Commentaries and Glossaries, as well as the Medieval Latin Translation, and with an excursus on Graeco-Arabic editorial technique, Brill: Leiden & Boston.
- –––, 2012, “Platon. Tradition arabe”, in DPhA, Va, 845–63.
- Gyekye K., 1979, Arabic Logic. Ibn al-Tayyib’s Commentary on Porphyry’s Eisagoge, SUNY Press, Albany.
- Haddad, R., 1974, “Hunayn ibn Ishaq apologiste chrétien”, Arabica, 21, 292–302.
- Hadot, I., 1991, “The role of the commentaries on Aristotle in the teaching of philosophy according to the Prefaces of the Neoplatonic commentaries on the Categories”, Oxford Studies in Ancient Philosophy, Supplementary Volume: Aristotle and the Later Tradition, ed. by H.-J. Blumenthal and H. Robinson, 175–89.
- Hansberger, R. E., 2014, “The Arabic Adaptation of the Parva Naturalia (Kitab al-hiss wa-l-mahsus)”, Studia graeco-arabica, 4, 301–14.
- –––, forthcoming, The Transmission of Aristotle’s Parva Naturalia in Arabic.
- Hasnaoui, A., 1994, “Alexandre d’Aphrodise vs Jean Philopon: notes sur quelques traités d’Alexandre ‘perdus’ en grec, conservés en arabe”, Arabic Sciences and Philosophy, 4, 53–109.
- –––, 1996, “Un élève d’Abu Bishr Matta ibn Yunus: Abu ʿ;Amr al-Tabari”, Bulletin d’Études Orientales, 48, 25–34.
- –––, 2007, “Boèce, Averroès et Abu al-Barakat al-Bagdadi, témoins des écrits de Thémistius sur les Topiques d’Aristote”, Arabic Sciences and Philosophy, 17, 203–65.
- Hugonnard-Roche, H., 1989, “L’Organon. Tradition syriaque et arabe”, in DPhA, I, 502–28.
- –––, 1993, “Remarques sur la tradition arabe de l’Organon d’après le manuscrit Paris, Bibliothèque Nationale, ar. 2346”, in Ch. Burnett (ed.), Glosses and Commentaries on Aristotelian Logical Texts. The Syriac, Arabic and Medieval Latin Traditions, The Warburg Institute, London, 19–28.
- –––, 1999, “Averroès et la tradition des Seconds Analytiques”, in G. Endress and J. Aertsen (eds.), Averroes and the Aristotelian Tradition. Sources, Constitution and Reception of the Philosophy of Ibn Rushd (1126–1198), Proceedings of the Fourth Symposium Averroicum, Brill, Leiden, 172–87.
- –––, 2001, “La tradizione della logica aristotelica”, in Storia della scienza, vol. IV, sez. I. La scienza siriaca. Coordinamento scientifico di J. Teixidor, collaborazione di R. Contini, Istituto della Enciclopedia Italiana, Roma, 16–26.
- –––, 2003a, “De caelo. Tradition syriaque et arabe”, in DPhA, Suppl., 283–94.
- –––, 2003b, “Pseudo-Aristote, De plantis”, in DPhA, Suppl., 499–505.
- –––, 2003c, “La Poétique. Tradition syriaque et arabe”, in DPhA, Suppl., 208–18.
- –––, 2004, La logique d’Aristote du grec au syriaque. Études sur la transmission des textes de l’Organon et leur interprétation philosophique, Vrin, Paris.
- –––, 2009,“ La tradition gréco-syriaque des commentaires d’Aristote”, in V. Calzolari and J. Barnes (eds.), L’oeuvre de David l’Invincible et la transmission de la philosophie grecque dans la tradition armé et syriaque, Brill, Leiden-Boston, 153–77.
- –––, 2010,“Platon syriaque”, in M.A. Amir-Moezzi, J.D. Dubois, J. Jullien, F. Jullien (eds.), Pensée grecque et sagesse d’Orient. Hommage à Michel Tardieu, Brepols, Turnhout, 307–22.
- –––, 2011, “Le mouvement des traductions syriaques: arrière-plan historique et sociologique”, in R. Goulet and U. Rudolph (eds.), Entre Orient et Occident. La philosophie et la science gréco-romaines dans le monde arabe, 57 Entretiens sur l’Antiquité Classique, Fondation Hardt, Vandoeuvres – Genève, 45–77.
- –––, 2012, “Porphyre de Tyr. III. Survie orientale”, in DPhA, Vb, 1447–68.
- –––, 2012a, “Le commentaire syriaque de Probus sur l’Isagoge de Porphyre. Une étude préliminaire”, Studia graeco-arabica, 2, 227–43.
- –––, 2013, “Sur la lecture tardo-antique du Peri Hermeneias d’Aristote: Paule le Perse et la tradition d’Ammonius. Edition du texte syriaque, trad. fr. et commentaire de l’Elucidation du Peri Hermeneias de Paul le Perse”, Studia graeco-arabica, 3, 37–104.
- –––, 2014, “La question de l’âme dans la tradition philosophique syriaque (VIe-IXe siècle”, Studia graeco-arabica, 4, 17–64.
- Ivry, A., 1974, Al-Kindi’s Metaphysics. A Translation of Yaʿqub ibn Ishaq al-Kindi’s Treatise ‘On First Philosophy’ (fi al-Falsafah al-Ula), with Introduction and Commentary, SUNY Press, Albany.
- –––, 2001, “The Arabic text of Aristotle’s De Anima and its translator”, Oriens, 36, 59–77.
- Jambet Ch., 2011, Qu’est-ce que la philosophie islamique?, Gallimard, Paris.
- King, D., 2010, The Earliest Syriac Translation of Aristotle’s Categories. Text Translation and Commentary, Brill, Leiden.
- Klein-Franke, F., 1973, “Zur Überlieferung der platonischen Schriften im Islam”, Israel Oriental Studies, 3, 120–39.
- Kellermann-Rost, M., 1965, Ein pseudoaristotelischer Traktat über die Tugend. Edition und Übersetzung der arabischen Fassungen des Abu Qurra und des Ibn at-Tayyib, Diss. Erlangen.
- Kraemer, Joel L., 1965, “A Lost passage from Philoponus Contra Aristotelem in Arabic translation (Simpl. De caelo, I, 3, 270b5–11)”, Journal of the American Oriental Society, 75, 318–27.
- –––, 1992, Humanism in the Renaissance of Islam. The Cultural Revival during the Buyid Age, Brill, Leiden – New York, Köln.
- Kraus, P., 1934, “Zu Ibn al-Muqaffa”, Rivista degli Studi Orientali, 14, 1–20 (repr. in Alchemie, Ketzerei, Apokryphen im frühen Islam. Gesammelte Aufsätze hrsg. u. eingeleitet von R. Brague, Olms, Hildesheim, Zürich, New York 1994).
- Kraus, P. and R. Walzer, 1951, Galeni Compendium Timaei Platonis aliorumque dialogorum synopsis quae extant fragmenta ediderunt P. Kraus et R. Walzer, Warburg Institute, London 1943 (Kraus Reprint, Nendeln 1973).
- Kruk, R., 1979, The Arabic Version of Aristotle’s Parts of Animals: book XI–XIV of the Kitab al-Hayawan, Royal Netherlands Academy of Arts and Sciences, Amsterdam-Oxford.
- –––, 2003, “La zoologie aristotélicienne. Tradition arabe”, in DPhA, Suppl., 329–34.
- Kukkonen, T., 2011, “Theology versus Philosophy in the Arab World”, in EMPh, 1270–76.
- Lameer, P., 1994, Al-Farabi and Aristotelian Syllogistics. Greek Theory and Islamic Practice, Brill, Leiden, New York, Köln.
- Lettinck, P., 1994, Aristotle’s Physics and its Reception in the Arabic World, with an edition of the unpublished parts of Ibn Bajja’s Commentary on the Physics, Brill, Leiden, New York – Köln.
- –––, 2002, “Aristotle’s ‘Physical’ Works in the Arabic World,” Medioevo. Rivista di storia della filosofia medievale, 27, 22–52.
- Livingston, J.W., 1981, “Qusta ibn Luqa’s Psycho-Physiological Treatise On the Difference Between the Soul and the Spirit”, Scripta mediterranea, 2, 53–77.
- Lyons, M.C., 1973, An Arabic Translation of Themistius’ Commentary on Aristotle’s De Anima, Cassirer, Oxford.
- –––, 1982, Aristotle’s Ars Rhetorica. The Arabic version, Pembroke Arabic Texts, Cambridge.
- Mahdi, M., 1967, “Alfarabi against Philoponus”, Journal of Near Eastern Studies, 26, 233–60.
- –––, 1972, “The Arabic Text of Alfarabi’s Against John the Grammarian”, in Medieval and Middle Eastern Studies in Honor of Aziz Suryal Atiya, ed. by Sami A. Hanna, Brill, Leiden, 268–84.
- Manzalaoui, M., 1974, “The pseudo-Aristotelian Kitab Sirr al-asrar. Facts and Problems”, Oriens, 23–24 (1970–71), 147–257.
- Maróth, M., 2006, The Correspondence between Aristotle and Alexander the Great. An anonymous Greek novel in letters in Arabic translation, The Avicenna Institute of Middle Eastern Studies, Piliscsaba.
- Martin, A., 1989, “La Métaphysique. Tradition syriaque et arabe”, in DPhA, I, 538–34.
- Martini Bonadeo, C., 2003, “La Métaphysique. Tradition syriaque et arabe. Mise à jour bibliographique”, in DPhA Suppl., 259–64.
- –––, 2004, “Ὡς ἐρώμενον. Alcune interpretazioni di Metaph. Λ 7”, in V. Celluprica, R. Chiaradonna, and C. D’Ancona (eds.), Aristotele e i suoi esegeti neoplatonici. Logica e ontologia nelle interpretazioni greche e arabe, Bibliopolis, Napoli, 213–43.
- –––, 2011a, “Abu Bishr Matta ibn Yunus”, in EMPh, 13–14.
- –––, 2011b, “Ibn al-Samh”, in EMPh, 514.
- –––, 2011c, “Ibn Suwar (Ibn Khammar)”, in EMPh, 527–28.
- –––, 2011d, “Ibn Zura, Isa ibn ishaq”, inEMPh, 536.
- –––, 2011e, “Yahya ibn Adi”, in EMPh, 1420–23.
- Meyerhof, M., 1926a, “New Light on Hunayn ibn Ishaq and his period”, Isis, 8, 685–724.
- –––, 1926b, “Les versions syriaques et arabes des écrits galéniques”, Byzantion 3, 33–51.
- Minio-Paluello, L., 1951, “La tradizione semitico-latina dei Secondi Analitici”, Rivista di filosofia neoscolastica, 43, 97–124 (reprint Opuscula. The Latin Aristotle, Hakkert, Amsterdam 1972, 127–54).
- Nasr, S.H., 1996a, “The Meaning and Concept of Philosophy in Islam”, in S. H. Nasr, O. Leaman (eds), History of Islamic Philosophy, I–II, Routledge London, New York, 21–26.
- –––, 1996b, “The Qur’an and Hadith as Source and Inspiration of Islamic Philosophy”, ibid., 27–39.
- Peters, F.E., 1968, Aristoteles Arabus. The Oriental Translations and Commentaries on the Aristotelian corpus, Brill, Leiden.
- Pines, S., 1937, Beiträge zur islamischen Atomenlehre, Heine, Berlin 1936 (reprint Garland, New York 1987); English trans. Studies in Islamic Atomism, The Magnes Press, Jerusalem 1997.
- –––, 1952, “La ‘Philosophie orientale’ d’Avicenne et sa polémique contre les Bagdadiens”, Archives d’Histoire doctrinale et littéraire du Moyen Age, 19, 1–37.
- –––, 1972, “An Arabic Summary of a lost work of John Philoponus”, Israel Oriental Studies, 2, 294–326 (repr. in The Collected Works of Shlomo Pines, II, 320–52).
- –––, 1986, “The spiritual force permeating the cosmos according to a passage in the Treatise On the Principles of the All, ascribed to Alexander of Aphrodisias”, in The Collected Works of Shlomo Pines II, 252–55.
- –––, 1987, “Some distinctive metaphysical conceptions in Themistius’ commentary on Book Lambda and their place in the history of philosophy”, in J. Wiesner (ed.) Aristoteles. Werk und Wirkung, II, de Gruyter, Berlin - New York, 177–204 (repr. in The Collected Works of Shlomo Pines, III, 267–94).
- Platti, E., 1983, Yahya ibn ʿAdi, théologien chrétien et philosophe arabe, Orientalia Lovaniensia Analecta, Leuven.
- Possekel, U., 1998, “Der ‘Rat der Theano’. Eine pythagoreische Spruchsammlung in syrischer Übersetzung”, Le Muséon, 111, 3–76.
- Puig Montada, J., 2011, “Natural Philosophy, Arabic”, in EMPh, 849–58.
- Rashed, M., 2003, “De generatione et corruptione. Tradition arabe”, in DPhA Suppl., 304–14.
- –––, 2015, Al-Hasan ibn Musa al-Nawbahti, Commentary on Aristotle De Generatione et corruptione, Edition, translation and commentary, De Gruyter, Berlin.
- Rashed, R. and J. Jolivet, 1999, Œuvres philosophiques et scientifiques d’al-Kindi, vol. II. Métaphysique et cosmologie. Brill, Leiden-Boston-Köln.
- Raven, W., 2003, “De Mundo. Tradition syriaque et arabe”, in DPhA, Suppl., 481–83.
- Reisman, D.C., 2004, “Plato’s Republic in Arabic. A newly discovered passage”, Arabic Sciences and Philosophy, 263–300.
- –––, 2005, “Al-Farabi and the philosophical curriculum”, in P. Adamson and R. C. Taylor (eds.), The Cambridge Companion to Arabic Philosophy, Cambridge University Press, Cambridge, 52–71.
- –––, 2011, “Thabit ibn Qurra”, in EMPh, 1258–59.
- Reisman, D. C. and A. Bertolacci, 2009, Thabit ibn Qurra’s ‘Concise Exposition of Aristotle’s Metaphysics’: Text, Translation, and Commentary, in R. Rashedd (ed.), Thabit ibn Qurra. Science and Philosophy in ninth-century Baghdad, De Gruyter, Berlin – New York, 715–76.
- Rosenthal, F., 1937, “Arabische Nachrichten über Zenon den Eleaten”, Orientalia, 6, 21–67 (repr. in Greek Philosophy in the Arab World. A Collection of Essays, Variorum, Aldershot 1990).
- –––, 1940, “On the Knowledge of Plato’s Philosophy in the Islamic World”, Islamic Culture, 14, 387–422.
- –––, 1941, “Some Pythagorean documents transmitted in Arabic”, Orientalia, 10, 104–115; 383–395.
- –––, 1970, Knowledge Triumphant. The Concept of Knowledge in Medieval Islam, Brill, Leiden.
- –––, 1974, “Plotinus in Islam: the Power of Anonymity”, in Plotino e il Neoplatonismo in Oriente e in Occidente. Atti del convegno internazionale Roma, 5–9 ottobre 1970, Accademia Nazionale dei Lincei, Roma (Problemi attuali di scienza e di cultura, 198), 437–46.
- –––, 1975, The Classical Heritage in Islam, Routledge & Kegan Paul, London.
- Rudolph, U., 1989, Die Doxographie des pseudo-Ammonius. Ein Beitrag zur neuplatonischen Überlieferung im Islam, Steiner, Stuttgart.
- Ruland H.-J., 1978, “Die arabische Übersetzung der Schrift des Alexander von Aphrodisias über die Sinneswahrnehmung”, Nachrichten der Akademie der Wissenschaften zu Göttingen. Philologisch-historische Klasse 5, 159–225.
- Ryan, W.F. and C.B. Schmitt (eds.), (1982) Pseudo-Aristotle, The Secret of Secrets. Sources and Influences. The Warburg Institute, London.
- Sabra, A., 2006, “Kalam Atomism as an alternative philosophy to Hellenizing falsafa”, in J. E. Montgomery (ed.), Arabic theology, Arabic philosophy. From the many to the one. Essays in celebration of Richard M. Frank, Peeters, Leuven, 199–271.
- Samir Kh., 1986, “Les versions arabes de Nemésius de Homs”, in M. Pavan and U. Cozzoli (eds.), L’eredità classica nelle lingue orientali, Istituto dell’Enciclopedia Italiana, Roma, 99–151.
- Schmidt, E.A.– M. Ullmann, Aristoteles in Fes. Zum Wert der arabischen Überlieferung der Nikomachischen Ethik fÜur die Kritik des griechischen Textes, Heidelberg 2012.
- Schmidtke, S. 2016, (ed.) The Oxford Handbook of Islamic Theology , Oxford University Press, Oxford.
- Schoonheim, P.L., 2000, Aristotle’s Meteorology in the Arabico-Latin Tradition, Brill, Leiden.
- –––, 2003, “Météorologiques. Tradition syriaque, arabe et latine”, in DPhA, Suppl., 324–28.
- Schrier, O.J., 1997, “The Syriac and Arabic Versions of Aristotle’s Poetics”, in The Ancient Tradition in Christian and Islamic Hellenism. Studies on the Transmission of Greek Philosophy and Sciences dedicated to H.J. Drossaart Lulofs on his ninetieth birthday, ed. by G. Endress and R. Kruk, CNWS Research, Leiden, 259–78.
- Serra, G., 1973, “Note sulla traduzione arabo-latina del De Generatione et corruptione di Aristotele”, Giornale Critico della Filosofia Italiana, 52, 383–427.
- –––, 1997, “La traduzione araba del De Generatione et corruptione di Aristotele citata nel Kitab al-Tasrif attribuito a Jabir”, Medioevo. Rivista di storia della filosofia medievale, 23, 191–288.
- Stern, S. M., 1956, “Ibn al-Samh”, Journal of the Royal Asiatic Society, 31–44.
- Strohmaier, G., 1990, “Hunayn ibn Ishaq al-Ibadi”, in EI2, III, 578.
- Thillet, P., 2003, Alexandre d’Aphrodise. Traité de la providence, Περὶ προνοίας, version arabe de Abu Bishr Matta ibn Yunus, introduction édition et traduction de P. Thillet, Verdier, Paris.
- Thomann, J., 2003, “La tradition arabe de la Physiognomonie d’Aristote”, in DPhA Suppl., 496–98.
- Tkatsch, J., 1928–32, Die arabische Übersetzung der Poetik des Aristoteles und die Grundlage der Kritik des griechischen Textes, Akademie der Wissenschaften in Wien, Wien – Leipzig.
- Troupeau, G., 1984, “Un épitomé arabe du De contingentia mundi de Jean Philopon”, in É. Lucchesi and H. D. Saffrey (eds.), Mémorial André-Jean Festugière. Antiquité païenne et chrétienne, Genève, 77–88.
- Troupeau, G., Dagher, J., Miquel, A., 2011, Qusta ibn Luqa al-Ba’labakki, Epître sur la différence entre l’esprit et l’âme, Geuthner, Paris.
- Ullmann, M., 2011–12, Die Nikomachische Ethik des Aristoteles in arabischer Übersetzung, I–II, Wiesbaden.
- Vallat, Ph., 2011, “Alexandrian Tradition into Arabic: Philosophy”, in EMPh, 66–73.
- van Ess, J., 1966, “Über einige neue Fragmente des Alexander von Aphrodisias und des Proklos in arabischer Übersetzung”, Der Islam, 42, 48–68.
- –––, 1976, “Disputationspraxis in der islamischen Theologie. Eine vorlaufige Skizze”, Revue des Etudes Islamiques, 44, 23–60.
- –––, 1991–97, Theologie und Gesellschaft im 2. und 3. Jahrhundert Hidschra. Eine Geschichte des religiösen Denkens im frühen Islam, I–VI, De Gruyter, Berlin.
- Wakelnig, E., 2006, Feder, Tafel, Mensch. Al-ʿAmiri’s Kitab al-Fusul fi l-maʿalim al-ilahiyya und die arabische Proklos-Rezeption im 10. Jh., Brill: Leiden & Boston.
- –––, 2011, “Proclus, Arabic”, in EMPh, 1078–81.
- –––, 2012, “The Other Arabic Version of Proclus’ De aeternitate mundi. The surviving first eight arguments”, Oriens, 40, 51–95.
- –––, 2014, A Philosophy Reader from the Circle of Miskawayh edited and translated, Cambridge University Press, Cambridge.
- Walzer, R., 1937, “Un frammento nuovo di Aristotele”, Studi Italiani di Filologia Classica, 14, 127–37 (repr. in Greek into Arabic. Essays on Islamic Philosophy, Cassirer, Oxford 1963, 38–47).
- –––, 1950, “The Rise of Islamic Philosophy”, Oriens, 3, 1–19.
- –––, 1960, “Platonismus in der islamischen Philosophie (arabische Übersetzung aus dem griechischen)” in Antike und Orient im Mittelalter. Miscellanea Mediaevalia 1, de Gruyter, Berlin 1962, 179–95.
- –––, 1970, “L’éveil de la philosophie islamique”, Revue des Études Islamiques, 38, 7–42; 207–41.
- Watt, J., 2004, “Syriac translators and Greek Philosophy in Early Abbasid Iraq”, Journal of the Canadian Society for Syriac Studies, 4, 15–26.
- Watt, J., 2015, “The Syriac Aristotelian Tradition and the Syro-Arabic Baghdad Philosophers”, in D. Janos (ed.), Ideas in Motion in Baghdad and beyond: philosophical and theological exchanges between Christians and Muslims in the third/ninth and fourth/tenth centuries, Brill, Leiden, 7–43.
- Watt, J. and M. Aouad, 2003, “La Rhétorique. Tradition syriaque et arabe (compléments)”, in DPhA, Suppl., 219–23.
- Wildberg, Ch., 1987, Philoponus. Against Aristotle, on the Eternity of the World. Cornell University Press, Ithaca.
- Wisnovsky R., 2003, Avicenna’s Metaphysics in Context, Cornell UP, Ithaca, New York.
- –––, 2012, “New Philosophical Texts of Yahya ibn ʿAdi: A Supplement to Endress’ Analytical Inventory”, in F. Opwis, D. Reisman (eds.), Islamic Philosophy, Science, Culture, and Religion. Studies in Honor of Dimitri Gutas, Brill: Leiden & Boston, 307–26.
- Wolfson H. A., 1976, The Philosophy of the Kalam, Harvard UP, Cambridge (MA).
- Zimmermann, F.W., 1981, Al-Farabi’s Commentary and Short Treatise on Aristotle’s De Interpretatione, Oxford University Press, Oxford.
- –––, 1986, “The Origins of the so-called Theology of Aristotle”, in J. Kraye, W. F. Ryan, and C.-B. Schmitt (eds.), Pseudo-Aristotle in the Middle Ages. The Theology and Other Texts, The Warburg Institute, London, 110–240.
- –––, 1987, “Philoponus’ Impetus Theory in the Arabic tradition”, i R. Sorabji (ed.), Philoponus and the Rejection of Aristotelian Science, Duckworth, London, 121–9.
- –––, 1994, “Proclus Arabus Rides Again”, Arabic Sciences and Philosophy, 4, 9–51.
- Zonta, M., 1991, “Nemesiana Syriaca: New Fragments from the missing Syriac version of the De Natura hominis”, Journal of Semitic Studies, 36, 223–58.
- –––, 2003, “Les Éthiques. Tradition syriaque et arabe”, in DPhA, Suppl., 191–98.
How to cite this entry. Preview the PDF version of this entry at the Friends of the SEP Society. Look up this entry topic at the Indiana Philosophy Ontology Project (InPhO). Enhanced bibliography for this entry at PhilPapers, with links to its database.
- Brief Bibliographical Guide for Islamic Philosophy and Theology.
- Averroes Database, at the Thomas-Institut der Universität zu Köln
- IDEO, Dominican Institute for Oriental Studies, in Cairo
- Greek into Arabic. Philosophical Concepts and Linguistic Bridges, European Research Council, Advanced Grant 249431.
- The Learning Roads: Studia graeco-arabica, features critical articles and reviews on the transmission of philosophical and scientific texts from and into various languages – Greek, Syriac, Arabic, and Latin – from late Antiquity to the Middle Ages and Renaissance.
My warmest thanks go to Deborah L. Black for her help with the English of this entry.