Photo of Emerson
(From Amos Bronson Alcott, Ralph Waldo Emerson: An Estimate of His Character and Genius: In Prose and in Verse, Boston: A. Williams and Co., 1882)

Ralph Waldo Emerson

First published Thu Jan 3, 2002; substantive revision Wed Aug 18, 2010

An American essayist, poet, and popular philosopher, Ralph Waldo Emerson (1803–82) began his career as a Unitarian minister in Boston, but achieved worldwide fame as a lecturer and the author of such essays as “Self-Reliance,” “History,” “The Over-Soul,” and “Fate.” Drawing on English and German Romanticism, Neoplatonism, Kantianism, and Hinduism, Emerson developed a metaphysics of process, an epistemology of moods, and an “existentialist” ethics of self-improvement. He influenced generations of Americans, from his friend Henry David Thoreau to John Dewey, and in Europe, Friedrich Nietzsche, who takes up such Emersonian themes as power, fate, the uses of poetry and history, and the critique of Christianity.


1. Chronology of Emerson's Life

1803 Born in Boston to William and Ruth Haskins Emerson.
1811 Father dies, probably of tuberculosis.
1812 Enters Boston Public Latin School
1817 Begins study at Harvard College: Greek, Latin, History, Rhetoric.
1820 Starts first journal, entitled “The Wide World.”
1821 Graduates from Harvard and begins teaching at his brother William's school for young ladies in Boston.
1825 Enters Harvard Divinity School.
1829 Marries Ellen Tucker and is ordained minister at Boston's Second Church.
1831 Ellen Tucker Emerson dies, at age 19.
1832 Resigns position as minister and sails for Europe.
1833 Meets Wordsworth, Coleridge, J. S. Mill, and Thomas Carlyle. Returns to Boston in November, where he begins a career as a lecturer.
1834 Receives first half of a substantial inheritance from Ellen's estate (second half comes in 1837).
1835 Marries Lidian Jackson.
1836 Publishes first book, Nature.
1838 Delivers the “Divinity School Address.” Protests relocation of the Cherokees in letter to President Van Buren.
1841 Essays published (contains “Self-Reliance,” “The Over-Soul,” “Circles,” “History”).
1842 Son Waldo dies of scarlet fever at the age of 5.
1844 Essays, Second Series published (contains “The Poet,” “Experience,” “Nominalist and Realist”).
1847–8 Lectures in England.
1850 Publishes Representative Men (essays on Plato, Swedenborg, Montaigne, Goethe, Napoleon).
1851–60 Speaks against Fugitive Slave Law and in support of anti-slavery candidates in Concord, Boston, New York, Philadelphia.
1856 Publishes English Traits.
1860 Publishes The Conduct of Life (contains “Culture” and “Fate”).
1867 Lectures in nine western states.
1870 Publishes Society and Solitude. Presents sixteen lectures in Harvard's Philosophy Department.
1872–3 After a period of failing health, travels to Europe, Egypt.
1875 Journal entries cease.
1882 Dies in Concord.

2. Major Themes in Emerson's Philosophy

2.1 Education

In “The American Scholar,” delivered as the Phi Beta Kappa Address in 1837, Emerson maintains that the scholar is educated by nature, books, and action. Nature is the first in time (since it is always there) and the first in importance of the three. Nature's variety conceals underlying laws that are at the same time laws of the human mind: “the ancient precept, ‘Know thyself,’ and the modern precept, ‘Study nature,’ become at last one maxim” (87). Books, the second component of the scholar's education, offer us the influence of the past. Yet much of what passes for education is mere idolization of books — transferring the “sacredness which applies to the act of creation…to the record.” The proper relation to books is not that of the “bookworm” or “bibliomaniac,” but that of the “creative” reader who uses books as a stimulus to attain “his own sight of principles.” Used well, books “inspire…the active soul” (88). Great books are mere records of such inspiration, and their value derives only, Emerson holds, from their role in inspiring or recording such states of the soul. The “end” Emerson finds in nature is not a vast collection of books, but, as he puts it in “The Poet,” “the production of new individuals,…or the passage of the soul into higher forms” (CW3:14)

The third component of the scholar's education is action. Without it, thought never “ripens into truth.” Action is the process whereby what is not fully formed passes into expressive consciousness (91–2). Action is also the scholar's “dictionary,” the source for what she has to say. The true scholar speaks from experience, not in imitation of others; her words, as Emerson puts it, are “are loaded with life…” (Z: 92). The scholar's education in original experience and self-expression is appropriate, according to Emerson, not only for a small class of people, but for everyone. Its goal is the creation of a democratic nation. Only when we learn to “walk on our own feet” and to “speak our own minds,” he holds, will a nation “for the first time exist” (Z: 104–5).

Emerson returned to the topic of education late in his career in “Education,” an address he gave in various versions at graduation exercises in the 1860's. Self-reliance appears in the essay in his discussion of respect. The “secret of Education,” he states, “lies in respecting the pupil.” It is not for the teacher to choose what the pupil will know and do, but for the pupil to discover “his own secret.” The teacher must therefore “wait and see the new product of Nature” (L: 143), guiding and disciplining when appropriate-not with the aim of encouraging repetition or imitation, but with that of finding the new power that is each child's gift to the world. The aim of education is to “keep” the child's “nature and arm it with knowledge in the very direction in which it points” (L: 144). This aim is sacrificed in mass education, Emerson warns. Instead of educating “masses,” we must educate “reverently, one by one,” with the attitude that “the whole world is needed for the tuition of each pupil” (L: 154).

2.2 Process

Emerson is in many ways a process philosopher, for whom the universe is fundamentally in flux and “permanence is but a word of degrees” (CW 2: 179). Even as he talks of “Being,” Emerson represents it not as a stable “wall” but as a series of “interminable oceans” (CW3: 42). This metaphysical position has epistemological correlates: that there is no final explanation of any fact, and that each law will be incorporated in “some more general law presently to disclose itself” (CW2: 181). Process is the basis for the succession of moods Emerson describes in “Experience,” (CW3: 30), and for the emphasis on the present throughout his philosophy.

Some of Emerson's most striking ideas about morality and truth follow from his process metaphysics: that no virtues are final or eternal, all being “initial,” (CW2: 187); that truth is a matter of glimpses, not steady views. We have a choice, Emerson writes in “Intellect,” “between truth and repose,” but we cannot have both (CW2: 202). Fresh truth, like the thoughts of genius, comes always as a surprise, as what Emerson calls “the newness” (CW3: 40). He therefore looks for a “certain brief experience, which surprise[s] me in the highway or in the market, in some place, at some time…” (Z: 253). This is an experience that cannot be repeated by simply returning to a place or to an object such as a painting. A great disappointment of life, Emerson finds, is that one can only “see” certain pictures once, and that the stories and people who fill a day or an hour with pleasure and insight are not able to repeat the performance.

Emerson's basic view of religion also coheres with his emphasis on process, for he holds that one finds God only in the present: “God is, not was” (Z: 123). In contrast, what Emerson calls “historical Christianity” (114) proceeds “as if God were dead” (Z: 116). Even history, which seems obviously about the past, has its true use, Emerson holds, as the servant of the present: “The student is to read history actively and not passively; to esteem his own life the text, and books the commentary” (CW2:5).

2.3 Morality

Emerson's views about morality are intertwined with his metaphysics of process, and with his perfectionism, his idea that life has the goal of passing into “higher forms” (CW3:14). The goal remains, but the forms of human life, including the virtues, are all “initial” (CW2: 187). The word “initial” suggests the verb “initiate,” and one interpretation of Emerson's claim that “all virtues are initial” is that virtues initiate historically developing forms of life, such as those of the Roman nobility or the Confucian junxi. Emerson does have a sense of morality as developing historically, but in the context in “Circles” where his statement appears he presses a more radical and skeptical position: that our virtues often must be abandoned rather than developed. “The terror of reform,” he writes, “is the discovery that we must cast away our virtues, or what we have always esteemed such, into the same pit that has consumed our grosser vices” (CW2: 187). The qualifying phrase “or what we have always esteemed such” means that Emerson does not embrace an easy relativism, according to which what is taken to be a virtue at any time must actually be a virtue. Yet he does cast a pall of suspicion over all established modes of thinking and acting. The proper standpoint from which to survey the virtues is the ‘new moment‘ — what he elsewhere calls truth rather than repose (CW2:202) — in which what once seemed important may appear “trivial” or “vain” (CW2:189). From this perspective (or more properly the developing set of such perspectives) the virtues do not disappear, but they may be fundamentally altered and rearranged.

Although Emerson is thus in no position to set forth a system of morality, he nevertheless delineates throughout his work a set of virtues and heroes, and a corresponding set of vices and villains. In “Circles” the vices are “forms of old age,” and the hero the “receptive, aspiring” youth (CW2:189). In the “Divinity School Address,” the villain is the “spectral” preacher whose sermons offer no hint that he has ever lived. “Self Reliance” condemns virtues that are really “penances” (CW2: 31), and the philanthropy of abolitionists who display an idealized “love” for those far away, but are full of hatred for those close by (CW2: 30).

Conformity is the chief Emersonian vice, the opposite or “aversion” of the virtue of “self-reliance.” We conform when we pay unearned respect to clothing and other symbols of status, when we show “the foolish face of praise” or the “forced smile which we put on in company where we do not feel at ease in answer to conversation which does not interest us” (CW2: 32). Emerson criticizes our conformity even to our own past actions-when they no longer fit the needs or aspirations of the present. This is the context in which he states that “a foolish consistency is the hobgoblin of little minds, adored by little statesmen, philosophers and divines” (CW2: 33). There is wise and there is foolish consistency, and it is foolish to be consistent if that interferes with the “main enterprise of the world for splendor, for extent, …the upbuilding of a man” (99).

If Emerson criticizes much of human life, he nevertheless devotes most of his attention to the virtues. Chief among these is what he calls “self-reliance.” The phrase connotes originality and spontaneity, and is memorably represented in the image of a group of nonchalant boys, “sure of a dinner…who would disdain as much as a lord to do or say aught to conciliate one…” The boys sit in judgment on the world and the people in it, offering a free, “irresponsible” condemnation of those they see as “silly” or “troublesome,” and praise for those they find “interesting” or “eloquent.” (CW2: 29). The figure of the boys illustrates Emerson's characteristic combination of the romantic (in the glorification of children) and the classical (in the idea of a hierarchy in which the boys occupy the place of lords or nobles).

Although he develops a series of analyses and images of self-reliance, Emerson nevertheless destabilizes his own use of the concept. “To talk of reliance,” he writes, “is a poor external way of speaking. Speak rather of that which relies, because it works and is” (CW 2:40). ‘Self-reliance’ can be taken to mean that there is a self already formed on which we may rely. The “self” on which we are to “rely” is, in contrast, the original self that we are in the process of creating. Such a self, to use a phrase from Nietzsche's Ecce Homo, “becomes what it is.”

For Emerson, the best human relationships require the confident and independent nature of the self-reliant. Emerson's ideal society is a confrontation of powerful, independent “gods, talking from peak to peak all round Olympus.” There will be a proper distance between these gods, who, Emerson advises, “should meet each morning, as from foreign countries, and spending the day together should depart, as into foreign countries” (CW 3:81). Even “lovers,” he advises, “should guard their strangeness” (CW3: 82). Emerson portrays himself as preserving such distance in the cool confession with which he closes “Nominalist and Realist,” the last of the Essays, Second Series:

I talked yesterday with a pair of philosophers: I endeavored to show my good men that I liked everything by turns and nothing long…. Could they but once understand, that I loved to know that they existed, and heartily wished them Godspeed, yet, out of my poverty of life and thought, had no word or welcome for them when they came to see me, and could well consent to their living in Oregon, for any claim I felt on them, it would be a great satisfaction (CW 3:145).

The self-reliant person will “publish” her results, but she must first learn to detect that spark of originality or genius that is her particular gift to the world. It is not a gift that is available on demand, however, and a major task of life is to meld genius with its expression. “The man,” Emerson states “is only half himself, the other half is his expression” (CW 3:4). There are young people of genius, Emerson laments in “Experience,” who promise “a new world” but never deliver: they fail to find the focus for their genius “within the actual horizon of human life” (CW 3:31). Although Emerson emphasizes our independence and even distance from one another, then, the payoff for self-reliance is public and social. The scholar finds that the most private and secret of his thoughts turn out to be “the most acceptable, most public, and universally true” (Z: 97). And the great “representative men” Emerson identifies are marked by their influence on the world. Their names-Plato, Moses, Jesus, Luther, Copernicus, even Napoleon-are “ploughed into the history of the world” (Z: 112).

Although self-reliance is central, it is not the only Emersonian virtue. Emerson also praises a kind of trust, and the practice of a “wise skepticism.” There are times, he holds, when we must let go and trust to the nature of the universe: “As the traveler who has lost his way, throws his reins on his horse's neck, and trusts to the instinct of the animal to find his road, so must we do with the divine animal who carries us through this world” (3:15). But the world of flux and conflicting evidence also requires a kind of epistemological and practical flexibility that Emerson calls “wise skepticism” (318). His representative skeptic of this sort is Michel de Montaigne, who as portrayed in Representative Men is no unbeliever, but a man with a strong sense of self, rooted in the earth and common life, whose quest is for knowledge. He wants “a near view of the best game and the chief players; what is best in the planet; art and nature, places and events; but mainly men” (CW4: 91). Yet he knows that life is perilous and uncertain, “a storm of many elements,” the navigation through which requires a flexible ship, “fit to the form of man.” (CW4: 91).

2.4 Christianity

The son of a Unitarian minister, Emerson attended Harvard Divinity School and was employed as a minister for almost three years. Yet he offers a deeply felt and deeply reaching critique of Christianity in the “Divinity School Address,” flowing from a line of argument he establishes in “The American Scholar.” If the one thing in the world of value is the active soul, then religious institutions, no less than educational institutions, must be judged by that standard. Emerson finds that contemporary Christianity deadens rather than activates the spirit. It is an “Eastern monarchy of a Christianity” in which Jesus, originally the “friend of man,” is made the enemy and oppressor of man. A Christianity true to the life and teachings of Jesus should inspire “the religious sentiment” — a joyous seeing that is more likely to be found in “the pastures,” or “a boat in the pond” than in a church. Although Emerson thinks it is a calamity for a nation to lose the capacity to worship (Z: 122) he finds it strange that, given the “famine of our churches” (Z: 117) anyone should attend them. He therefore calls on the Divinity School graduates to breathe new life into the old forms of their religion, to be friends and exemplars to their parishioners, and to remember “that all men have sublime thoughts; that all men value the few real hours of life; they love to be heard; they love to be caught up into the vision of principles” (Z: 124).

2.5 Power

Power is a theme in Emerson's early writing, but it becomes especially prominent in such middle- and late-career essays as “Experience,” “Montaigne, or the Skeptic” “Napoleon,” and “Power.” Power is related to action in “The American Scholar,” where Emerson holds that a “true scholar grudges every opportunity of action passed by, as a loss of power” (Z: 92). It is also a subject of “Self-Reliance,” where Emerson writes of each person that “the power which resides in him is new in nature” (CW2:28). In “Experience” Emerson speaks of a life which “is not intellectual or critical, but sturdy” (CW3:294); and in “Power” he celebrates the “bruisers” (P: 372) of the world who express themselves rudely and get their way. The power in which Emerson is interested, however, is more artistic and intellectual than political or military. In a characteristic passage from “Power,” he states:

In history the great moment is, when the savage is just ceasing to be a savage, with all his hairy Pelasgic strength directed on his opening sense of beauty:-and you have Pericles and Phidias,-not yet passed over into the Corinthian civility. Everything good in nature and the world is in that moment of transition, when the swarthy juices still flow plentifully from nature, but their astringency or acridity is got out by ethics and humanity” (P: 375).

Power is all around us, but it cannot always be controlled. It is like “a bird which alights nowhere,” hopping “perpetually from bough to bough” (CW3:34). Moreover, we often cannot tell at the time when we exercise our power that we are doing so: happily we sometimes find that much is accomplished in “times when we thought ourselves indolent” (CW3:28).

2.6 Unity and Moods

At some point in many of his essays and addresses, Emerson enunciates, or at least refers to, a great vision of unity. He speaks in “The American Scholar” of an “original unit” or “fountain of power” (Z: 84), of which each of us is a part. He writes in “The Divinity School Address” that each of us is “an inlet into the deeps of Reason.” And in “Self-Reliance,” the essay that more than any other celebrates individuality, he writes of “the resolution of all into the ever-blessed ONE” (CW 2:40). “The Oversoul” is Emerson's most sustained discussion of “the ONE,” but he does not, even there, shy away from the seeming conflict between the reality of process and the reality of an ultimate metaphysical unity. How can the vision of succession and the vision of unity be reconciled?

Emerson never comes to a clear or final answer. One solution he both suggests and rejects is an unambiguous idealism, according to which a nontemporal “One” or “Oversoul” is the only reality, and all else is illusion. He suggests this, for example, in the many places where he speaks of waking up out of our dreams or nightmares. But he then portrays that to which we awake not simply as an unchanging “ONE,” but as a process or succession: a “growth” or “movement of the soul” (CW2: 189); or a “new yet unapproachable America” (CW3: 259).

Emerson undercuts his visions of unity (as of everything else) through what Stanley Cavell calls his “epistemology of moods.” According to this epistemology, most fully developed in “Experience” but present in all of Emerson's writing, we never apprehend anything “straight” or in-itself, but only under an aspect or mood. Emerson writes that life is “a train of moods like a string of beads,” through which we see only what lies in each bead's focus (CW3: 30). The beads include our temperaments, our changing moods, and the “Lords of Life” which govern all human experience. The Lords include “Succession,” “Surface,” “Dream,” “Reality,” and “Surprise.” Are the great visions of unity, then, simply aspects under which we view the world?

Emerson's most direct attempt to reconcile succession and unity, or the one and the many, occurs in the last essay in the Essays, Second Series, entitled “Nominalist and Realist.” There he speaks of the universe as an “old Two-face…of which any proposition may be affirmed or denied” (CW3: 144). As in “Experience,” Emerson leaves us with the whirling succession of moods. “I am always insincere,” he skeptically concludes, “as always knowing there are other moods” (CW3: 145). But Emerson enacts as well as describes the succession of moods, and he ends “Nominalist and Realist” with the “feeling that all is yet unsaid,” and with at least the idea of some universal truth (CW3: 363).

3. Some Questions about Emerson

3.1 Consistency

Emerson routinely invites charges of inconsistency. He says the world is fundamentally a process and fundamentally a unity; that it resists the imposition of our will and that it flows with the power of our imagination; that travel is good for us, since it adds to our experience, and that it does us no good, since we wake up in the new place only to find the same “ sad self” we thought we had left behind (CW2: 46).

Emerson's “epistemology of moods” is an attempt to construct a framework for encompassing what might otherwise seem contradictory outlooks, viewpoints, or doctrines. Emerson really means to “accept,” as he puts it, “the clangor and jangle of contrary tendencies” (CW3: 36). He means to be irresponsible to all that holds him back from his self-development. That is why, at the end of “Circles,” he writes that he is “only an experimenter…with no Past at my back” (CW2: 188). In the world of flux that he depicts in that essay, there is nothing stable to be responsible to: “every moment is new; the past is always swallowed and forgotten, the coming only is sacred” (CW2: 189).

Despite this claim, there is considerable consistency in Emerson's essays and among his ideas. To take just one example, the idea of the “active soul” — mentioned as the “one thing in the world, of value” in “The American Scholar-is a presupposition of Emerson's attack on “the famine of the churches” (for not feeding or activating the souls of those who attend them); it is an element in his understanding of a poem as “a thought so passionate and alive, that, like the spirit of a plant or an animal, it has an architecture of its own …” (CW3: 6); and, of course, it is at the center of Emerson's idea of self-reliance. There are in fact multiple paths of coherence through Emerson's philosophy, guided by ideas discussed previously: process, education, self-reliance, and the present.

3.2 Early and Late Emerson

It is hard for an attentive reader not to feel that there are important differences between early and late Emerson: for example, between the buoyant Nature (1836) and the weary ending of “Experience” (1844); between the expansive author of “Self-Reliance” (1841) and the burdened writer of “Fate” (1860). Emerson himself seems to advert to such differences when he writes in “Fate”: “Once we thought positive power was all. Now we learn that negative power, or circumstance, is half” (Z: 369). Is “Fate” the record of a lesson Emerson had not absorbed in his early writing, concerning the multiple ways in which circumstances over which we have no control — plagues, hurricanes, temperament, sexuality, old age — constrain self-reliance or self-development?

“Experience” is a key transitional essay. “Where do we find ourselves?” is the question with which it begins. The answer is not a happy one, for Emerson finds that we occupy a place of dislocation and obscurity, where “sleep lingers all our lifetime about our eyes, as night hovers all day in the boughs of the fir-tree” (CW3: 27). An event hovering over the essay, but not disclosed until its third paragraph, is the death of his five-year old son Waldo. Emerson finds in this episode and his reaction to it an example of an “unhandsome” general character of existence-it is forever slipping away from us, like his little boy.

“Experience” presents many moods. It has its moments of illumination, and its considered judgment that there is an “Ideal journeying always with us, the heaven without rent or seam” (CW3: 41). It offers wise counsel about “skating over the surfaces of life” and confining our existence to the “mid-world.” But even its upbeat ending takes place in a setting of substantial “defeat.” “Up again, old heart!” a somewhat battered voice states in the last sentence of the essay. Yet the essay ends with an assertion that in its great hope and underlying confidence chimes with some of the more expansive passages in Emerson's writing. The “true romance which the world exists to realize,” he states, “will be the transformation of genius into practical power” (CW3: 49).

Despite important differences in tone and emphasis, Emerson's assessment of our condition remains much the same throughout his writing. There are no more dire indictments of ordinary human life than in the early work, “The American Scholar,” where Emerson states that “Men in history, men in the world of today, are bugs, are spawn, and are called ‘the mass’ and ‘the herd.’ In a century, in a millennium, one or two men; that is to say, one or two approximations to the right state of every man” (99). Conversely, there is no more idealistic statement in his early work than the statement in “Fate” that “[t]hought dissolves the material universe by carrying the mind up into a sphere where all is plastic” (377). All in all, the earlier work expresses a sunnier hope for human possibilities, the sense that Emerson and his contemporaries were poised for a great step forward and upward; and the later work, still hopeful and assured, operates under a weight or burden, a stronger sense of the dumb resistance of the world.

3.3 Sources and Influence

Emerson read widely, and gave credit in his essays to the scores of writers from whom he learned. He kept lists of literary, philosophical, and religious thinkers in his journals and worked at categorizing them.

Among the most important writers for the shape of Emerson's philosophy are Plato and the Neoplatonist line extending through Plotinus, Proclus, Iamblichus, and the Cambridge Platonists. Equally important are writers in the Kantian and Romantic traditions (which Emerson probably learned most about from Coleridge's Biographia Literaria). Emerson read avidly in Indian, especially Hindu, philosophy, and in Confucianism. There are also multiple empiricist, or experience-based influences, flowing from Berkeley, Wordsworth and other English Romantics, Newton's physics, and the new sciences of geology and comparative anatomy. Other writers whom Emerson often mentions are Anaxagoras, St. Augustine, Francis Bacon, Jacob Behmen, Cicero, Goethe, Heraclitus, Lucretius, Mencius, Pythagoras, Schiller, Thoreau, August and Friedrich Schlegel, Shakespeare, Socrates, Madame de Staël and Emanuel Swedenborg.

Emerson's works were well known throughout the United States and Europe in his day. Nietzsche read German translations of Emerson's essays, copied passages from “History” and “Self-Reliance” in his journals, and wrote of the Essays: that he had never “felt so much at home in a book.” Emerson's ideas about “strong, overflowing” heroes, friendship as a battle, education, and relinquishing control in order to gain it, can be traced in Nietzsche's writings. Other Emersonian ideas-about transition, the ideal in the commonplace, and the power of human will permeate the writings of such classical American pragmatists as William James and John Dewey.

Stanley Cavell's engagement with Emerson is the most original and prolonged by any philosopher, and Emerson is a primary source for his writing on “moral perfectionism.” In his earliest essays on Emerson, such as “Thinking of Emerson” and “Emerson, Coleridge, Kant,” Cavell considers Emerson's place in the Kantian tradition, and he explores the affinity between Emerson's call in “The American Scholar” for a return to “the common and the low” and Wittgenstein's quest for a return to ordinary language. In “Being Odd, Getting Even” and “Aversive Thinking,” Cavell considers Emerson's anticipations of existentialism, and in these and other works he explores Emerson's affinities with Nietzsche and Heidegger.

In Conditions Handsome and Unhandsome (CHU) and Cities of Words, Cavell develops what he calls “Emersonian moral perfectionism,” of which he finds an exemplary expression in Emerson's “History”: “So all that is said of the wise man by Stoic, or oriental or modern essayist, describes to each reader his own idea, describes his unattained but attainable self.” Emersonian perfectionism is oriented towards a wiser or better self that is never final, always initial, always on the way.

Cavell does not have a neat and tidy definition of perfectionism, and his list of perfectionist works ranges from Plato's Republic to Wittgenstein's Philosophical Investigations, but he identifies “two dominating themes of perfectionism” in Emerson's writing: (1) “that the human self … is always becoming, as on a journey, always partially in a further state. This journey is described as education or cultivation”; (2) “that the other to whom I can use the words I discover in which to express myself is the Friend—a figure that may occur as the goal of the journey but also as its instigation and accompaniment” (Cities of Words, 26-7). The friend can be a person but it may also be a text. In the sentence from “History” cited above, the writing of the “Stoic, or oriental or modern essayist” about “the wise man” functions as a friend and guide, describing to each reader not just any idea, but “his own idea.” This is the text as instigator and companion.

Cavell's engagement with perfectionism springs from a response to his colleague John Rawls, who in A Theory of Justice condemns Nietzsche (and implicitly Emerson) for his statement that “mankind must work continually to produce individual great human beings.” “Perfectionism,” Rawls states, “is denied as a political principle.” Cavell replies that Emerson's (and Nietzsche's) focus on the great man has nothing to do with a transfer of economic resources or political power, or with the idea that “there is a separate class of great men …for whose good, and conception of good, the rest of society is to live” (CHU, 49). The great man or woman, Cavell holds, is required for rather than opposed to democracy: “essential to the criticism of democracy from within” (CHU, 3).

Bibliography

Works by Emerson

CW The Collected Works of Ralph Waldo Emerson, ed. Robert Spiller et al, Cambridge, Mass: Harvard University Press, 1971-
Z Selected Essays and Addresses, ed. L. Ziff, New York: Penguin, 1982
P Ralph Waldo Emerson, ed Richard Poirier (The Oxford Authors), Oxford and New York: Oxford University Press, 1990
“Education,” in Lectures and Biographical Sketches, in The Complete Works of Ralph Waldo Emerson, ed. Edward Waldo Emerson, Boston: Houghton Mifflin, 1883, pp. 125–59
The Complete Works of Ralph Waldo Emerson, ed. Edward Waldo Emerson, Boston: Houghton Mifflin, 12 volumes, 1903–4
The Journals of Ralph Waldo Emerson, ed. Edward Waldo Emerson and Waldo Emerson Forbes. 10 vols., Boston and New York: Houghton Mifflin, 1910–14
The Journals and Miscellaneous Notebooks of Ralph Waldo Emerson, ed. William Gillman, et al., Cambridge: Belknap Press, Harvard University Press
The Early Lectures of Ralph Waldo Emerson, 3 vols, Stephen E. Whicher, Robert E. Spiller, and Wallace E. Williams, eds., Cambridge, Mass: Harvard University Press, 1961–72
The Letters of Ralph Waldo Emerson, ed. Ralph L. Rusk and Eleanor M. Tilton . 10 vols. New York: Columbia University Press, 1964–95
(with Thomas Carlyle), The Correspondence of Emerson and Carlyle, ed. Joseph Slater, New York: Columbia University Press, 1964
Emerson's Antislavery Writings, eds. Len Gougeon and Joel Myerson, New Haven and London: Yale University Press, 1995
The Later Lectures of Ralph Waldo Emerson, eds. Ronald Bosco and Joel Myerson, Athens: University of Georgia Press, 2003
Emerson: Political Writings (Cambridge Texts in the History of Political Thought), ed. Kenneth Sacks, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 2008

(See Chronology for original dates of publication.)

Selected Writings on Emerson

  • Allen, Gay Wilson, 1981,Waldo Emerson, New York: Viking Press.
  • Bishop, Jonathan, 1964, Emerson on the Soul, Cambridge, MA: Harvard University Press.
  • Buell, Lawrence, 2003, Emerson, Cambridge, MA: Harvard University Press.
  • Cameron, Sharon, 2007, Impersonality, Chicago: University of Chicago Press.
  • Carpenter, Frederick Ives, 1930, Emerson and Asia, Cambridge, MA: Harvard University Press.
  • Cavell, Stanley, 1981, “Thinking of Emerson” and “An Emerson Mood,” in The Senses of Walden, An Expanded Edition, San Francisco: North Point Press.
  • –––, 1988, In Quest of the Ordinary: Lines of Skepticism and Romanticism, Chicago: University of Chicago Press.
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