Distributive Justice

First published Sun Sep 22, 1996; substantive revision Tue Sep 26, 2017

The economic, political, and social frameworks that each society has—its laws, institutions, policies, etc.—result in different distributions of benefits and burdens across members of the society. These frameworks are the result of human political processes and they constantly change both across societies and within societies over time. The structure of these frameworks is important because the distributions of benefits and burdens resulting from them fundamentally affect people’s lives. Arguments about which frameworks and/or resulting distributions are morally preferable constitute the topic of distributive justice. Principles of distributive justice are therefore best thought of as providing moral guidance for the political processes and structures that affect the distribution of benefits and burdens in societies, and any principles which do offer this kind of moral guidance on distribution, regardless of the terminology they employ, should be considered principles of distributive justice.

This entry is structured in the following way. After outlining the scope of the entry and the role of distributive principles, the first relatively simple principle of distributive justice examined is Strict Egalitarianism, which calls for the allocation of equal material goods to all members of society. John Rawls’ alternative distributive principle, which he calls the Difference Principle, is examined next. The Difference Principle permits diverging from strict equality so long as the inequalities in question would make the least advantaged in society materially better off than they would be under strict equality. Some have thought that neither strict equality nor Rawls’ Difference Principle capture the important moral roles of luck and responsibility. The “Luck Egalitarianism” literature comprises varying attempts to design distributive principles that are appropriately sensitive to considerations of responsibility and luck. Desert-based principles similarly emphasize the moral roles of responsibility and luck but are distinct because they approach these factors through claims about what people deserve because of their work.

Advocates of welfare-based principles (of which utilitarianism is the most famous) do not believe the primary distributive concern should be material goods and services. They argue that material goods and services have no intrinsic value but are valuable only in so far as they increase welfare. Hence, they argue, distributive principles should be designed and assessed according to how they affect welfare, either its maximization or distribution. Advocates of libertarian principles, by contrast to each of the principles so far mentioned, generally criticize any distributive ideal that requires the pursuit of specific ‘patterns’, such as maximization or equality of welfare or of material goods. They argue that the pursuit of such patterns conflicts with the more important moral demands of liberty or self-ownership. Finally, feminist critiques of existing distributive principles note that they tend to ignore the particular circumstances of women, so feminists tend to argue for principles which are more sensitive to facts such as that women often have primary responsibility for child-rearing and on average, spend less of their lifetimes than men in the market economy.

1. Scope and Role of Distributive Principles

Distributive principles vary in numerous dimensions. They vary in what is considered relevant to distributive justice (income, wealth, opportunities, jobs, welfare, utility, etc.); in the nature of the recipients of the distribution (individual persons, groups of persons, reference classes, etc.); and on what basis the distribution should be made (equality, maximization, according to individual characteristics, according to free transactions, etc.). In this entry, the focus is primarily on principles designed to cover the distribution of benefits and burdens of economic activity among individuals in a society. Although principles of this kind have been the dominant source of Anglo-American debate about distributive justice over the last six decades, there are other important distributive justice questions, some of which are covered by other entries in the encyclopedia. These include questions of distributive justice at the global level rather than just at the national level (see justice: international), distributive justice across generations (see justice: intergenerational) and how the topic of distributive justice can be approached, not as a set of principles but as a virtue (see justice: as a virtue).

Although the numerous distributive principles vary along different dimensions, for simplicity, they are presented here in broad categories. Even though these are common classifications in the literature, it is important to keep in mind they necessarily involve over-simplification, particularly with respect to the criticisms of each of the groups of principles. Some criticisms may not apply equally to every principle in the group. The issue of how we are to understand and respond to criticisms of distributive principles is discussed briefly in the final section on methodology (see Methodology).

Throughout most of history, people were born into, and largely stayed in, a fairly rigid economic position. The distribution of economic benefits and burdens was normally seen as fixed, either by nature or by a deity. Only when there was a widespread realization that the distribution of economic benefits and burdens could be affected by government did distributive justice become a live topic. Now the topic is unavoidable. Governments continuously make and change laws and policies affecting the distribution of economic benefits and burdens in their societies. Almost all changes, whether they regard tax, industry, education, health, etc. have distributive effects. As a result, every society has a different distribution at any point in time and we are becoming increasingly more adept at measuring that distribution. More importantly, at every point in time now, each society is faced with a choice about whether to stay with current laws, policies, etc. or to modify them. The practical contribution of distributive justice theory is to provide moral guidance for these constant choices.

Many writers on distributive justice have tended to advocate and defend their particular principles by describing or considering ideal societies operating under them. They have been motivated to do this as an aid to understanding what their principles mean. Unfortunately though, as a result of this practice, some readers and the general public have been misled into believing that discussions of distributive justice are merely exercises in ideal theory—to be dismissed as a past-time of the academic elite rather than as something that is crucially relevant to current political discussion. This misunderstanding is unfortunate because, in the end, the main purpose of distributive justice theory is not to inform decisions about ideal societies but about our societies. To help correct this misunderstanding it is important to acknowledge that there has never been, and never will be, a purely libertarian society or Rawlsian society, or any society whose distribution conforms to one of the proposed principles. Rather than guiding choices between ideal societies, distributive principles are most usefully thought of as providing moral guidance for the choices that each society faces right now. So, for instance, advocates of Rawls’ Difference Principle are most constructively understood as arguing for changes to our basic institutional structures which would improve the lifetime prospects of the least advantaged in society. Other theorists are arguing for changes to bring economic benefits and burdens more in accordance with what people really deserve. Libertarians are arguing that reductions in government intervention in the economy will better respect liberty and/or self-ownership of its citizens. Sometimes a number of the theories may recommend the same changes to our current practices; other times they will diverge. It is best to understand the different theorists, despite the theoretical devices they sometimes employ, to be speaking to what should be done in our society—not about what should be done in some hypothetical society. Of course, ensuring that philosophical principles be effective for the purpose of guiding policy and change in real societies involves important and complex methodological questions. For a review of work specifically addressing this issue, in ideal and nonideal theory, see Zofia Stemplowska and Adam Swift (2012), and Valentini (2012).

Distributive justice theorists (perhaps like all theorists) tend to emphasize the differences between their theories. This emphasis also provides an avenue for those who have an interest in ignoring distributive justice to dismiss the relevance of the distributive justice literature—‘we cannot get any guidance from these theorists—they completely disagree with each other’. Such dismissals misunderstand that it is impossible not to take a stand on distributive justice at every moment of a society’s existence. This misunderstanding is, perhaps, best illustrated by the most common type of dismissal. Often governments try to justify inaction, in the face of calls to change some government policy in light of some distributive justice concern, on the grounds that there are ‘disagreements/lack of consensus’ about the issue. Of course, there always are disagreements, on any topic, whether moral or empirical, which will have a differential effect on people’s material interests. But to think that this points to the desired conclusion—that in light of this we should retain the status quo for the time being—reveals a confusion about the nature of the choices always facing each society. So, in this instance, to claim that we should not pursue any changes to our economic structures in light of a distributive justice argument calling for change is, by its very nature, to take a stand on the distributive justice of (or, if one prefers, the morality of) the current distribution and structures in the society compared to any of the possible alternative distributions and structures practically available. At any particular moment the existing economic and institutional framework is influencing the current distribution of economic and life prospects for all members of the society. To assert that we should not change the current system is therefore, despite implications to the contrary, to take a substantive position on distributive justice debates. It is to argue that keeping the existing distribution is morally preferable to changing to any practical alternative proposed—to take a substantive position in just the area that it was claimed was too controversial to consider. Societies cannot avoid taking positions about distributive justice all the time and any suggestion that they can should be resisted as incoherent.

A related point can be made when people assert that economic structures and policy should be left to economists, or when people assert that economic policy can be pursued without reference to distributive justice. These assertions reveal misconceptions about what distributive justice and economics are, and how they are related. Positive economics, at its best, can tell us about economic causes and effects. Positive economics is very important for distributive justice because it can give us guidance about which changes to pursue in order to better instantiate our moral principles. What it cannot do, in the absence of the principles, is tell us what we should do. This point is easily lost in everyday political discussion. When an economist says ‘The Central Bank should raise interest rates’, the general population often, mistakenly, believes the recommendation is purely coming from the science of economics. Moreover the ‘should’ is almost always a moral ‘should’. When economists make such a recommendation they, sometimes unconsciously, have taken off their social scientific hat. They are employing alongside their positive economic theory, a moral principle. Suppressing, either consciously or unconsciously, that there are always moral arguments being employed in arguments about what economic policies a government should pursue has had the effect of creating misconceptions about the respective roles of positive economics and distributive justice in government decision-making.

For instance, the raising of interest rates is typically thought by economists to have the dual effects of suppressing inflation and suppressing employment. To get to a recommendation that the Central Bank should reduce interest rates involves not only empirical views about the relative sizes of the inflation and unemployment effects and their long-term impact on growth, etc. but also normative views about the relative moral importance of inflation, employment and growth. For economists, these normative views on economic policies come under the rubric of ‘normative’ economics, while philosophers would typically categorize them under ‘distributive justice’. But the rubrics are not important as basically the same area is covered under different names—the normative evaluation of economic policies, structures, or institutions. (To avoid confusion it should be noted that the distributive justice tradition includes principles which do not use ‘justice’ per se, such as utilitarianism, but which are moral principles relating to distribution just the same.) The evaluations often look different because economists most commonly use utility as their fundamental moral concept while philosophers use a wider variety of moral concepts, but the task in which they are both engaged is very similar. What is most important to understand here is that positive economics alone cannot, without the guidance of normative principles, recommend which policies, structures, or institutions to pursue. Distributive justice theories, such as those discussed in this entry, aim to supply this kind of normative guidance.

2. Strict Egalitarianism

One of the simplest principles of distributive justice is that of strict, or radical, equality. The principle says that every person should have the same level of material goods (including burdens) and services. The principle is most commonly justified on the grounds that people are morally equal and that equality in material goods and services is the best way to give effect to this moral ideal.

Even with this ostensibly simple principle, some of the difficult specification problems of distributive principles can be seen. The two main problems are the construction of appropriate indices for measurement (the index problem), and the specification of time frames. Because there are numerous proposed solutions to these problems, the ‘principle of strict equality’ is not a single principle but a name for a group of closely related principles. This range of possible specifications occurs with all the common principles of distributive justice.

The index problem arises primarily because the goods and services to be distributed need to be measured if they are going to be distributed according to some pattern (such as equality). The strict equality principle stated above says that there should be ‘the same level of material goods and services’. The problem is how to specify and measure levels. The simplest way of solving the index problem in the strict equality case is to specify that everyone should have the same bundle of material goods and services rather than the same level (so everyone would have 4 oranges, 6 apples, 1 bike, etc.). The problem with adopting this simple solution is that there will be many other allocations of material goods and services which will make some people better off without making anybody else worse off. Such allocations are what are called ‘Pareto superior’ allocations (see equality for a more detailed discussion of Pareto efficiency). For instance, someone who prefers apples to oranges will be better off if she swaps some of her oranges for some of the apples belonging to a person who prefers oranges. That way, they are both better off and no one is worse off. Indeed, since most everyone will wish to trade something, requiring identical equal bundles will make virtually everybody worse off than they would be under an alternative allocation. So specifying that everybody must have the same bundle of goods does not seem to be a satisfactory way of solving the index problem. Some index for measuring the value of goods and services is required.

Money is an index for the value of material goods and services. It is an imperfect index whose pitfalls are documented in most economics textbooks. Moreover, once the goods to be allocated are extended beyond material ones to include goods such as opportunities, money must be combined with other indices. (For instance, John Rawls’ index of primary goods—see Rawls 1971.) Nevertheless, using money, either in the form of income or wealth or both, as an index for the value of material goods and services is the most common response to the index problem. In terms of public, rather than academic discourse, GDP (gross domestic product) or per capita GDP is most commonly touted as the way to measure the effect of governments’ policies on the population’s well-being. The deficiencies in such indices has now been well-documented and has lead to the proposing of better alternative indices such as the Human Development Index (HDI) and Inequality-adjusted Human Development Index (IHDI). Unfortunately, the general population is generally unaware of these more accurate indices and so are disadvantaged in their ability to judge the distributive justice effects of their governments’ policies.

The second main specification problem involves time frames. Many distributive principles identify and require that a particular pattern of distribution be achieved or at least be pursued as the objective of distributive justice. But they also need to specify when the pattern is required. One version of the principle of strict equality requires that all people should have the same wealth at some initial point, after which people are free to use their wealth in whatever way they choose, with the consequence that future outcomes are bound to be unequal. Principles specifying initial distributions after which the pattern need not be preserved are commonly called ‘starting-gate’ principles. (See Ackerman 1980, 53–59,168–170,180–186; Alstott and Ackerman 1999.)

Because ‘starting-gate’ principles may eventually lead to large inequalities, strict egalitarians do not usually favor them. The most common form of strict equality principle specifies that income (measured in terms of money) should be equal in each time-frame, though even this may lead to significant disparities in wealth if variations in savings are permitted. Hence, strict equality principles are commonly conjoined with some society-wide specification of just saving behavior (see justice: intergenerational). In practice, however, this principle and the starting-gate version might require more similar distributions than it first appears. This is because the structure of the family means the requirement to give people equal starts will often necessitate redistribution to parents, who due to bad luck, bad management, or simply their own choices, have been unsuccessful in accruing or holding on to material goods.

There are a number of direct moral criticisms made of strict equality principles: that they unduly restrict freedom, that they do not give best effect to the moral equality of persons, that they conflict with what people deserve, etc. (see the sections on Libertarian Principles, and Desert-Based Principles, and the entry on equality). But the most common criticism is a welfare-based one related to the Pareto efficiency requirement: that everyone can be materially better off if incomes are not strictly equal (Carens 1981). It is this criticism which partly inspired the Difference Principle.

3. The Difference Principle

The wealth of an economy is not a fixed amount from one period to the next, but can be influenced by many factors relevant to economic growth. These include, for example, technological advancement or changes in policy that affect how much people are able to produce with their labour and resources. More wealth can be produced and indeed this has been the overwhelming feature of industrialized countries over the last couple of centuries. The dominant economic view is that wealth is most readily increased in systems where those who are more productive earn greater incomes. This economic view partly inspired the formulation of the Difference Principle.

The most widely discussed theory of distributive justice in the past four decades has been that proposed by John Rawls in A Theory of Justice, (Rawls 1971), and Political Liberalism, (Rawls 1993). Rawls proposes the following two principles of justice:

1. Each person has an equal claim to a fully adequate scheme of equal basic rights and liberties, which scheme is compatible with the same scheme for all; and in this scheme the equal political liberties, and only those liberties, are to be guaranteed their fair value.

2. Social and economic inequalities are to satisfy two conditions: (a) They are to be attached to positions and offices open to all under conditions of fair equality of opportunity; and (b), they are to be to the greatest benefit of the least advantaged members of society. (Rawls 1993, pp. 5–6. The principles are numbered as they were in Rawls’ original A Theory of Justice.)

Where the rules may conflict in practice, Rawls says that Principle (1) has lexical priority over Principle (2), and Principle (2a) has lexical priority over (2b). As a consequence of the priority rules, Rawls’ principles do not permit sacrifices to basic liberties in order to generate greater equality of opportunity or a higher level of material goods, even for the worst off. While it is possible to think of Principle (1) as governing the distribution of liberties, it is not commonly considered a principle of distributive justice given that it is not governing the distribution of economic goods per se. Equality of opportunity is discussed in the next section. In this section, the primary focus will be on (2b), known as the Difference Principle.

The main moral motivation for the Difference Principle is similar to that for strict equality: equal respect for persons. Indeed, since the only material inequalities the Difference Principle permits are those that raise the level of the least advantaged in the society, it materially collapses to a form of strict equality under empirical conditions where differences in income have no effect on the work incentive of people (and hence, no tendency to increase growth). The overwhelming economic opinion though is that in the foreseeable future the possibility of earning greater income will bring forth greater productive effort. This will increase the total wealth of the economy and, under the Difference Principle, the wealth of the least advantaged. Opinion divides on the size of the inequalities which would, as a matter of empirical fact, be allowed by the Difference Principle, and on how much better off the least advantaged would be under the Difference Principle than under a strict equality principle. Rawls’ principle, however, gives fairly clear guidance on what type of arguments will count as justifications for inequality. Rawls is not opposed in principle to a system of strict equality per se; his concern is about the absolute position of the least advantaged group rather than their relative position. If a system of strict equality maximizes the absolute position of the least advantaged in society, then the Difference Principle advocates strict equality. If it is possible to raise the absolute position of the least advantaged further by having some inequalities of income and wealth, then the Difference Principle prescribes inequality up to that point where the absolute position of the least advantaged can no longer be raised.

Because there has been such extensive discussion of the Difference Principle in the last 40 years, there have been numerous criticisms of it from the perspectives of all the other theories of distributive justice outlined here. Briefly, the main criticisms are as follows.

Advocates of strict equality argue that inequalities permitted by the Difference Principle are unacceptable even if they do benefit the absolute position of the least advantaged. The problem for these advocates has been to explain convincingly why society should be prevented from materially benefiting the least advantaged when this benefit requires a deviation from strict equality.

For the strict egalitarian the relative position of people is all important and the absolute position is either not important at all or lexically inferior. For Rawls, at least with respect to the social and economic inequalities, the opposite is true. But there have been various plausible explanations given in reply to Rawls’ proposed Difference Principle why relative position is a value that should be weighed against the value of the absolute position of the least advantaged rather than subordinated lexically to it. In an early reply to Rawls, Crocker explains the value of paying attention to the relative position as a way of understanding the value of solidarity. His approach fits into a set of views in which being materially equal, or striving towards it, is an important expression of the equality of persons.

G.A. Cohen (1992) also provides a critique of Rawls’ Difference Principle that is inspired by what he calls an “egalitarian ethos”. Cohen accepts greater income for some where this raises the level of the least well off, and acts as compensation for work that involves special burdens, such as being particularly unpleasant or dangerous. In such cases, the income differences actually have an “equalizing” effect. However, Cohen rejects applications of the Difference Principle in the context of greater incomes to induce those who are particularly talented to undertake work which will benefit the least advantaged, particularly when that work, as is often the case, is already more fulfilling than other employment options. His justification is that such incentives are not strictly necessary to improve the level of the least well off, in a Rawlsian well-ordered society, where citizens would willingly accept and comply with the demands of the Difference Principle. In other words, if larger incomes are necessary only because the talented are taking advantage of the demand for their talent to seek maximal economic gain, then the Difference Principle should not be interpreted as sanctioning them. Cohen’s critique effectively urges a stricter reading of the requirements of the Difference Principle than Cohen believes Rawls and many of his supporters have held.

Another set of views, in opposition to Rawls’ Difference Principle, emphasizes the importance of relative position not as a value in itself but because of its effect on other relations. In particular, if some people are significantly better off materially than others then that can result in them having significant power over others. Rawls’ response to this criticism appeals to the lexical priority of his first principle: The inequalities consistent with the Difference Principle are only permitted so long as they do not compromise the fair value of the political liberties. So, for instance, very large wealth differentials may make it practically impossible for poor people to be elected to political office or to have their political views represented. These inequalities of wealth, even if they increase the material position of the least advantaged group, may need to be reduced in order for the first principle to be implemented. However, while this provides a partial reply to Rawls’ critics, it does not seem to recognize that it is not just differential political power that can come from significant differences in economic position but also economic power and hence economic freedom. Virtual monopoly employers in regions of developing economies give a stark illustration of this phenomenon. Of course, Rawls can appeal in such cases to the empirical claim that such differentials do not maximize the long-term position of the least advantaged. The empirical question will be whether all such large differentials which result in large differences in economic power also demonstrably have the result of worsening the absolute position of the least advantaged.

The utilitarian objection to the Difference Principle is that it does not maximize utility. In A Theory of Justice, Rawls uses utilitarianism as the main theory for comparison with his own, and hence he offers a number of arguments in response to this utilitarian objection, some of which are outlined in the section on Welfare-Based Principles.

Libertarians object that the Difference Principle involves unacceptable infringements on liberty, property rights, or self-ownership. For instance, the Difference Principle may require redistributive taxation for the benefit of the poor, and libertarians commonly object that such taxation involves the immoral taking of just holdings (see Libertarian Principles).

The Difference Principle is also criticized as a primary distributive principle on the grounds that it mostly ignores claims that people deserve certain economic benefits in light of their actions. Advocates of desert-based principles argue that some may deserve a higher level of material goods because of their hard work or contributions even if their unequal rewards do not also function to improve the position of the least advantaged. Desert theorists as well as libertarians also argue that the explanation of how people come to be in more or less advantaged positions is morally relevant to their fairness, yet the Difference Principle ignores these explanations.

Like desert theorists, advocates of Luck Egalitarian principles argue that the Difference Principle does not fully capture the moral roles they believe luck and responsibility should play in principles of distributive justice. Indeed, ‘luck egalitarianism’ as a distinct approach in the distributive justice literature really developed in critical response to Rawls’ theory of distributive justice. The reasons for that response are outlined in the next section.

4. Equality of Opportunity and Luck Egalitarianism

The distribution of material goods and services is not the only economic distribution which is important to people. The distribution of opportunities is also important. As noted in the previous section, John Rawls conjoined his Difference Principle with a principle of equality of opportunity. Endorsement of some form of equality of opportunity is very prevalent among distributive justice theorists and, indeed, among the general population, especially when combined with some form of market distributive mechanism. Equality of opportunity is often contrasted favorably with ‘equality of outcome’ or strict egalitarianism, by those who believe that we can show equal concern, respect, or treatment of people without them having the same material goods and services, so long as they have equal economic opportunities. An equality of opportunity principle then, is combined with other principles to ensure that the inequalities permitted by the overall theory (whether utilitarian, desert, or a Rawlsian difference principle) are only justified if people have the relevant kind of equal opportunity to achieve greater or lesser amounts of goods. So an equality of opportunity principle allows those theorists who depart from strict equality to capture some of what nonetheless has motivated egalitarians. What is the morally best interpretation of this equality of opportunity principle has been a significant focus of research (see Equality of Opportunity), particularly among luck egalitarians. In fact, the luck egalitarian ideal (also sometimes known as the ‘level playing field’ ideal) elevates the role of equal opportunity to the central distributive ideal, so that distributive inequalities are only just when they flow from one’s choices or from factors for which one can reasonably be held responsible.

In 1988, Brian Barry gave an interesting reconstruction of the reasoning which led John Rawls to his Equal Opportunity and Difference Principles. Barry’s reconstruction and Ronald Dworkin’s earlier discussion (which we will come to later), have been seminal in the rise of the luck egalitarian literature; hence, a version of this argument is probably the best introduction to some of the relevant moral issues.

‘Formal’ equality of opportunity rules out formal discrimination on grounds such as a person’s race, ethnicity, age or gender. What is the underlying concern, shared by most theorists and the general population, with a society lacking formal equality of opportunity? The concern seems to be rooted in the belief that traits such as a persons’ gender or race are elements over which people have no control and, hence, a society in which people’s race or gender have fundamental effects on their lifetime economic prospects treats people unfairly. In such societies, whether people were born as the favored gender or race, and hence were favored economically, would simply be a matter of luck. Rawls’ claim is that structuring a society so that this ‘natural lottery’ has such fundamental effects on people’s lives is immoral, when we have the option to structure it another way, with a system of formal equality of opportunity.

The foregoing is relatively uncontroversial, but what made Rawls’ (and Barry’s) arguments so interesting was their claim that this line of reasoning actually leads to much stronger (and more contentious) requirements for social justice. They note that even with formal equality of opportunity, there will remain many factors over which people have no control but which will affect their lifetime economic prospects, such as whether a person’s family can afford to purchase good quality educational opportunities or health care. A society therefore will have reasons to adopt a more substantial equality of opportunity principle, with equal opportunities for education, health care, etc.—the same reasons it had for adopting a merely formal equality of opportunity principle.

Following this line of reasoning further (and it certainly has appeared to many that we have no principled reason to stop here) seems to lead to more radical conclusions than those who agreed with formal equality of opportunity would have imagined. A society with a more substantial equality of opportunity principle in place will still not be providing equality of opportunity for all. People are born into more or less nurturing families and social circumstances. People are born into families and neighborhoods which are more or less encouraging of education and the development of economically advantageous talents. There are a whole range of social influences which have fundamental and unequal effects on children’s economic prospects and for which they are in no way responsible—the influences children are exposed to are a matter of their luck in the ‘social lottery’. Moreover, the luck of the natural lottery is not just restricted to such characteristics as gender and race. Children are more or less fortunate in the distribution of natural talents as well.

A race where the starting line is arbitrarily staggered, where people’s prospects for winning are not largely determined by factors for which they are responsible but rather largely by luck, is not considered a fair race. Similarly, if society is structured so that people’s prospects for gaining more economic goods are not largely determined by factors for which they are responsible but rather largely by luck, then the society is open to the charge of being unfair. This is the challenging conclusion with which Barry, following Rawls, presents us.

In response to this challenge, Barry himself explores a number of avenues, including questioning whether economic distribution is really analogous to a race. Rawls, of course, responded to his own challenge by arguing that there is not a lot that can be done (morally) to make the social and natural opportunities more equal, so the fair response is to adopt the Difference Principle. Others, however, have taken this challenge in different directions.

Ronald Dworkin, (Dworkin 1981a, 1981b, 2000) provided one of the most detailed early responses to Rawls’ challenge. In retrospect, Dworkin’s theory is often identified as one of the earliest in the luck egalitarian literature, though Dworkin himself called his theory Resource Egalitarianism. Dworkin presented his key insight (i.e., what distinguishes him from Rawls) in terms of a distinction between ‘ambitions’ and ‘endowments’. Dworkin uses the term ‘ambitions’ to cover the realm of our choices and what results from our choices, such as the choice to work hard, or to spend money on expensive luxuries. His term ‘endowments’ refers to the results of brute luck, or those things over which we have no control, such as one’s genetic inheritance, or unforeseeable bad luck. Dworkin agrees with Rawls that natural inequalities are not distributed according to people’s choices, nor are they justified by reference to some other morally relevant fact about people, so people should not end up worse off as a result of bad luck in the natural lottery. However, Dworkin argues the Difference Principle fails to deliver on this ideal, since its formulation in terms of primary goods fails to recognize that those who are very unlucky, such as the severely ill or disabled, may need considerably greater shares of primary goods than others in order to achieve a reasonable life. Dworkin also argued that just economic distributions should be more responsive than the Difference Principle to the consequences of people’s choices.

Dworkin proposed that people begin with equal resources but be allowed to end up with unequal economic benefits as a result of their own choices. What constitutes a just material distribution is to be determined by the result of a thought experiment designed to model fair distribution. Suppose that everyone is given the same purchasing power and each uses that purchasing power to bid, in a fair auction, for resources best suited to their life plans. They are then permitted to use those resources as they see fit. Although people may end up with different economic benefits, none of them is given less consideration than another in the sense that if they wanted somebody else’s resource bundle they could have bid for it instead.

In Dworkin’s proposal we see his attitudes to ‘ambitions’ and ‘endowments’ which have become a central feature of luck egalitarianism (though under a wide variety of alternative names and further subset-distinctions). In terms of sensitivity to ‘ambitions’, Dworkin and many other luck egalitarians argue that provided people have an ‘equal’ starting point (in Dworkin’s case, resources) they should live with the consequences of their choices. They argue, for instance, that people who choose to work hard to earn more income should not be required to subsidize those choosing more leisure and hence less income.

With respect to ‘endowments’, Dworkin proposes a hypothetical compensation scheme in which he supposes that, before the hypothetical auction described above, people do not know their own natural endowments. However, they are able to buy insurance against being disadvantaged in the natural distribution of talents and they know that their payments will provide an insurance pool to compensate those people who are unlucky in the ‘natural lottery’.

Dworkin’s early proposals were very hypothetical and it was somewhat difficult to see what they meant in practice. Later luck egalitarians have tried to tease out the practical implications of their theories in more detail, though much of the debate still remains at the theoretical level. They agree with Dworkin’s recommendation, against Rawls’ Difference Principle approach, that those with unequal natural endowments should receive compensation. For instance, people born with disabilities, or ill-health, who have not brought these circumstances upon themselves, can be explicitly compensated so that they are not disadvantaged in their economic prospects. Under Rawls’ Difference Principle, though, no such explicit compensation is forthcoming—as Rawls says, the Difference Principle is not the principle of redress (Rawls 1971, 101). Of course, for the subset of people with long-term disabilities or ill-health who are also in the least advantaged group (variously defined by Rawls, but most commonly defined as the lowest socio-economic grouping) the Difference Principle will help. But the help will not be proportionate to their needs arising from their disabilities or ill-health.

Luck egalitarians continue to refine such aspects of their theories as (a) what they believe is the relevant conception of equality of opportunity, (b) how much of a role luck should play in the distribution of economic benefits and (c) what is the best conception of ‘luck’ (Arneson 1990 and 2001, Fleurbaey 2001, Hurley 2001 and 2003, Swift 2008, Sher 2010). Relatedly, they continue to explore what role responsibility should play in the distribution of economic goods (Sen 1985, Cohen 1997, Valentyne 1997, Knight 2011).

Because the luck egalitarian proposals have a similar motivation to the Difference Principle the moral criticisms of them tend to be variations on those leveled against the Difference Principle. However, as noted above, what is practically required of a society operating under the Difference Principle is relatively straightforward. How the theoretical concerns of luck egalitarians are to be practically implemented is often not so clear. For instance, it has seemed impossible to measure differences in people’s natural talents—unfortunately, people’s talents do not neatly divide into the natural and those for which people can be held responsible. A system of special assistance to the physically and mentally disabled and to the ill would be a partial implementation of the compensation system, but most natural inequalities would be left untouched by such assistance while the theories commonly require compensation for such inequalities. Exploring how in practical ways the economic systems can be refined to track responsibility while mitigating certain types of pure luck will be an ongoing challenge for luck egalitarians.

A different type of challenge has come from theorists who believe egalitarian justice is not wholly, or even primarily, about neutralising or compensating for bad brute luck. (See for example, Jonathan Wolff, 1998 and 2010, or Elizabeth Anderson, 1999 and 2010.) Such theorists believe the emphasis of justice should be the expression of equal respect for people, and the conditions which will allow for equal social standing or equal political participation. While some distributive measures for counteracting bad luck may be necessary, and taking people’s choices seriously may be part of respecting them, these theorists worry that emphasis on how unlucky people are in the natural lottery, or what poor choices people have made, can run counter to the goal of equal status.

5. Welfare-Based Principles

Welfare-based principles are motivated by the idea that what is of primary moral importance is the level of welfare of people. Advocates of welfare-based principles view the concerns of other theories—material equality, the level of primary goods of the least advantaged, resources, desert-claims, or liberty—as derivative concerns. They are valuable only in so far as they affect welfare and so all distributive questions should be settled entirely by how the distribution affects welfare.

Choosing welfare as the relevant value is only the first step towards answering the distributive questions. Welfare-theorists must also specify the welfare function. The welfare functions proposed vary according to what will count as welfare and the weighting system for that welfare. Economists defending some form of welfarism normally state the explicit functional form, while philosophers often omit this formality, concentrating on developing their theories in answer to two questions: 1) the question of what has intrinsic value (‘what counts as welfare’), and 2) the question of what actions or policies would maximize the intrinsic value. Moreover, philosophers have tended to focus on an extremely small subset of the available welfare functions. Although there are a number of advocates of alternative welfare functions (such as ‘equality of well-being’), most philosophical activity has concentrated on a variant known as utilitarianism. This theory can be used to illustrate most of the main characteristics of welfare-based principles.

Historically, utilitarians have used the term ‘utility’ rather than ‘welfare’ and utility has been defined variously as pleasure, happiness, or preference-satisfaction, etc. Jeremy Bentham, the historical father of utilitarianism, argued that the experience of pleasure was the only thing with intrinsic value, and all other things had instrumental value insofar as they contribute to the experience of pleasure or the avoidance of pain. His intellectual successor, John Stuart Mill, broadened this theory of intrinsic value to include happiness, or fulfillment. Modern philosophers since Kenneth Arrow, though, tend to argue that intrinsic value consists in preference-satisfaction, i.e. in individuals’ having what they want. So, for instance, the principle for distributing economic benefits for preference utilitarians is to distribute them so as to maximize preference-satisfaction. The welfare function for such a principle has a relatively simple theoretical form requiring the distribution maximizing the arithmetic sum of all satisfied preferences (unsatisfied preferences being negative), weighted for the intensity of those preferences. To accommodate uncertainty with respect to outcomes the function is modified so that expected utility, rather than utility, is maximized (see consequentialism).

The basic theory of utilitarianism is one of the simplest to state and understand. Much of the work on the theory therefore has been directed towards defending it against moral criticisms, particularly from the point of view of ‘commonsense’ morality. The criticisms and responses have been widely discussed in the literature on utilitarianism as a general moral theory (see consequentialism). Two of the most widely discussed criticisms will be mentioned here.

The first, which was famously articulated by John Rawls (1971), is that utilitarianism fails to take seriously the distinctness of persons. Maximization of preference-satisfaction is often taken as prudent in the case of individuals—people may take on greater burdens, suffering or sacrifice at certain periods of their lives so that their lives are overall better. The complaint against utilitarianism is that it takes this principle, commonly described as prudent for individuals, and uses it on an entity, society, unlike individuals in important ways. While it may be acceptable for a person to choose to suffer at some period in her life (be it a day, or a number of years) so that her overall life is better, it is often argued against utilitarianism that it is immoral to make some people suffer so that there is a net gain for other people. In the individual case, there is a single entity experiencing both the sacrifice and the gain. Also, the individuals, who suffer or make the sacrifices, choose to do so in order to gain some benefit they deem worth their sacrifice. In the case of society as a whole, there is no single experiential entity—some people suffer or are sacrificed so that others may gain. Furthermore, under utilitarianism, unlike the individual prudence case, there is no requirement for people to consent to the suffering or sacrifice, nor is there necessarily a unified belief in the society that the outcome is worth the cost.

A related criticism of utilitarianism involves the way it treats individual preferences about other peoples’ welfare or holdings. For instance, some people may have a preference that the members of some minority racial group have less material benefits. Under utilitarian theories, in their classical form, this preference or interest counts like any other in determining the best distribution. Hence, if racial preferences are widespread and are not outweighed by the minority’s contrary preferences (perhaps because the minority is relatively few in number compared to the majority), utilitarianism will recommend an inegalitarian distribution based on race if there is not some other utility-maximizing alternative on offer.

Utilitarians have responded to these criticisms in a number of ways. Often they just deny the empirical claim upon which the criticism rests. So they assert that the empirical conditions are such that utility maximizing will rarely require racial minorities to sacrifice or suffer for the benefit of others, or to satisfy the prejudices of others. Relatedly, utilitarians often emphasize the long run perspective required by their theory. They may concede that short-term maximization may point to distribution on a racial basis but that this would not be welfare-maximizing in the long run and that even greater welfare can be achieved by re-educating the majority so that racist preferences weaken or disappear over time, leading to a more harmonious and happier world. In reply, it is pointed out that the utilitarian must supply an account of why racist or sexist preferences should be discouraged if the same level of total long term utility could be achieved by encouraging the less powerful to be content with a lower position.

Critics of utilitarianism have responded that this reliance on the empirical conditions turning out a particular way undermines the plausibility of utilitarianism as a moral theory. They argue that we do not have to wait until we find out how strong the racist feelings are, how many are in the adversely affected racial minority, how many racists there are, etc. to know that racist policies are wrong. It is argued that given utilitarianism says that we do need to know these numbers in order to know when, if ever, racist policies are wrong, utilitarianism fails to adequately capture our moral judgments. Utilitarians respond that if their theory on rare occasions does require people to sacrifice or suffer in these or other ways, the unintuitiveness of this consequence is a result of our contrary moral judgments about right and wrong, which are fallible. For many utilitarians, commonsense moral judgments are best understood as providing us with ‘rules of thumb’ which are useful at the level of commonsense morality but can ultimately be mistaken at the level of ‘critical theory’.

Most recently, some utilitarians have drawn on institutional theory or game theory in defence, or in modification, of utilitarianism (see Hardin 1988, Goodin 1995, Bailey 1997). Noting that the consequences of individual actions are rarely determined in isolation, but rather in conjunction with the actions of many others, these ‘institutional’ or ‘indirect’ utilitarians argue that morally intuitive institutions such as constitutional rights, human rights and various property rights would be endorsed by this modified utilitarianism, and would forbid the morally horrible outcomes critics have feared utilitarianism could sanction.

Utilitarian distribution principles, like the other principles described here, have problems with specification and implementation. Most formulations of utilitarianism require interpersonal comparisons of utility. This means, for instance, that we must be able to compare the utility one person gains from eating an apple with that another gains from eating an apple. Furthermore, utilitarianism requires that differences in utility be measured and summed for widely disparate goods (so, for instance, the amount of utility a particular person gains from playing football is measured and compared with the amount of utility another gains from eating a gourmet meal). Some critics have argued that such interpersonal utility comparisons are impossible, even in theory, because even if all the diverse goods can be combined into a single index of ‘utility’ for an individual, there is no conceptually adequate way of calibrating such a measure among individuals (see Elster 1991).

Utilitarians face a greater problem than this theoretical one in determining what material distribution, or institutional structure, is prescribed by their theory. Those who share similar utilitarian theoretical principles frequently recommend very different distributions or structures to implement the principles. This problem occurs for other theories, with recommendations for distributions or economic structures to implement commonly varying among advocates with similar theoretical principles. But the advocates for other distributive principles tend to cluster significantly with respect to what they recommend. This is much less the case with respect to advocates for utilitarian and welfare-based distribution principles with advocates dispersed in their recommendations across the full range of possible distributions and economic structures. For instance, many preference utilitarians believe their principle prescribes strongly egalitarian structures with lots of state intervention while other preference utilitarians believe it prescribes a laissez faire style of capitalism.

There is an explanation for why utilitarianism seems so much less determinate in its policy (including structural) recommendations and it points to what is the greatest challenge to utilitarianism as a guiding distributive principle. Other distributive principles can rule out, relatively quickly, various policies on the grounds that they clearly violate the guiding principle, but utilitarians must examine, in great detail, all the policies on offer. For each policy, they must determine the distribution of goods and services yielded by the policy and at least three other factors: the identity of each person in the distribution (if individuals’ utility functions differ); the utility of each person from the goods and services distributed to them; the utility of each person from the policy itself. They must then aggregate these utilities across all individuals. The size of the information requirements make this task impossible. Hence, broad assumptions must be made and each different set of assumptions will yield a different answer, and so the answers range across the full set of policies on offer. Moreover, there is no obvious way to arbitrate between the different sets of assumptions. For instance, suppose three utilitarians agree on the same utilitarian distributive principle. Utilitarian 1, for example, may assert that the population’s utility function conforms to function A (e.g. people’s marginal utility is diminishing at rate R) and is maximized by Policy 1; Utilitarian 2, however, asserts that half the population’s utility function conforms to function A and half to function B (e.g. people’s marginal utility is diminishing at rate 2R) and is maximized by Policy 2; Utilitarian 3 asserts Utilitarian 2 is correct about the utility functions of the population but claims that Policy 3 is the one that will maximize utility. The challenge for contemporary utilitarians is to explain, given the massive informational requirements of utilitarianism and our apparent human inability to meet those requirements, how the population, and its experts, can plausibly arbitrate between conflicting policy and institutional recommendations coming from utilitarian theorists who share the same underlying normative principle.

6. Desert-Based Principles

Another complaint against welfarism is that it ignores, and in fact cannot even make sense of, claims that people deserve certain economic benefits in light of their actions (Feinberg, Lamont 1997). The complaint is often motivated by the concern that various forms of welfarism treat people as mere containers for well-being, rather than purposeful beings, responsible for their actions and creative in their environments.

The various proposed desert-based principles of distribution differ primarily according to what they identify as the basis for deserving. While Aristotle proposed virtue, or moral character, to be the best desert-basis for economic distribution, contemporary desert theorists have proposed desert-bases that are more practically implemented in complex modern societies. Most contemporary desert theorists have pursued John Locke’s lead in this respect. Locke argued people deserve to have those items produced by their toil and industry, the products (or the value thereof) being a fitting reward for their effort (see Miller 1989). Locke’s underlying idea was to guarantee to individuals the fruits of their own labor and abstinence. Most contemporary proposals for desert-bases fit into one of three broad categories:

  1. Contribution: People should be rewarded for their work activity according to the value of their contribution to the social product. (Miller 1976, Miller 1989, Riley 1989)
  2. Effort: People should be rewarded according to the effort they expend in their work activity (Sadurski 1985a,b, Milne 1986).
  3. Compensation: People should be rewarded according to the costs they incur in their work activity (Dick 1975, Lamont 1997).

According to the contemporary desert theorist, people freely apply their abilities and talents, in varying degrees, to socially productive work. People come to deserve varying levels of income by providing goods and services desired by others (Feinberg 1970). Distributive systems are just insofar as they distribute incomes according to the different levels earned or deserved by the individuals in the society for their productive labors, efforts, or contributions.

Contemporary desert-principles all share the value of raising the standard of living—collectively, ‘the social product’. Under each principle, only activity directed at raising the social product will serve as a basis for deserving income. The concept of desert itself does not yield this value of raising the social product; it is a value societies hold independently. Hence, desert principles identifying desert-bases tied to socially productive activity (productivity, compensation, and effort all being examples of such bases) do not do so because the concept of desert requires this. They do so because societies value higher standards of living, and therefore choose the raising of living standards as the primary value relevant to desert-based distribution. This means that the full development of desert-based principles requires specification (and defense) of those activities which will or will not count as socially productive, and hence as deserving of remuneration (Lamont 1994).

It is important to distinguish desert-payments from entitlements. For desert theorists a well-designed institutional structure will make it so that many of the entitlements people have are deserved. But entitlements and just deserts are not conceptually the same and regularly come apart. For instance, as Feinberg notes, a person can be entitled to assume the presidential office without deserving it (Feinberg 1970, 86) and a person who accidentally apprehends a criminal may be entitled to a reward but not deserve it. Conversely, a team may deserve to win the championship prize but not be entitled to it or a person may deserve an economic benefit but not be entitled to it. Indeed, these and many other instances of desert and entitlements coming apart provide the bases for desert theorists to argue for institutional reform. For desert theorists, the institutional structure should facilitate people’s economic entitlements (including one’s property holdings) tracking their just deserts.

Payments designed to give people incentives are a form of entitlement particularly worth distinguishing from desert-payments as they are commonly confused (Barry 1965, 111–112). Incentive-payments are ‘forward-looking’ in that they are set up to create a situation in the future, while desert-payments are ‘backwards-looking’in that they are justified with reference to work in the present or past. Even though it is possible for the same payment to be both deserved and an incentive, incentives and desert provide distinct rationales for income and should not be conflated (Lamont 1997).

While some have sought to justify current capitalist distributions via desert-based distributive principles, John Stuart Mill and many since have forcefully argued the contrary claim—that the implementation of a productivity principle would involve dramatic changes in modern market economies and would greatly reduce the inequalities characteristic of them. It is important to note, though, that contemporary desert-based principles are rarely complete distributive principles. They usually are only designed to cover distribution among working adults, leaving basic welfare needs to be met by other principles.

The specification and implementation problems for desert-based distribution principles revolve mainly around the desert-bases: it is difficult to identify what is to count as a contribution, an effort or a cost, and it is even more difficult to measure these in a complex modern economy.

The main moral objection to desert-based principles is that they make economic benefits depend on factors over which people have little control. John Rawls has made one of the most widely discussed arguments to this effect (Rawls 1971), and while a strong form of this argument has been clearly refuted (Zaitchik, Sher), it remains a problem for desert-based principles. The problem is most pronounced in the case of productivity-based principles—people’s productivity seems clearly to be influenced by many factors over which they have little control.

It is interesting to note that under most welfare-based principles, it is also the case that people’s level of economic benefits depends on factors beyond their control. But welfarists view this as a virtue of their theory, since they think the only morally relevant characteristic of any distribution is the welfare resulting from it. Whether the distribution ties economic benefits to matters beyond our control is morally irrelevant from the welfarist point of view. (As it happens, welfarists often hold the empirical claim that people have little control over their contributions to society anyway.) However, for people’s benefits to depend on factors beyond their control is a more awkward result for desert theorists who, with luck egalitarians, emphasize the responsibility of people in choosing to engage in more or less productive activities.

7. Libertarian Principles

Most contemporary versions of the principles discussed so far allow some role for the market as a means of achieving the desired distributive pattern—the Difference Principle uses it as a means of helping the least advantaged; utilitarian principles commonly use it as a means of achieving the distributive pattern maximizing utility; desert-based principles rely on it to distribute goods according to desert, etc. In contrast, advocates of libertarian distributive principles rarely see the market as a means to some desired pattern, since the principle(s) they advocate do not ostensibly propose a ‘pattern’ at all, but instead describe the sorts of acquisitions or exchanges which are just in their own right. The market will be just, not as a means to some pattern, but insofar as the exchanges permitted in the market satisfy the conditions of just acquisition and exchange described by the principles. For libertarians, just outcomes are those arrived at by the separate just actions of individuals; a particular distributive pattern is not required for justice. Robert Nozick advanced this version of libertarianism (Nozick 1974), and is its best known contemporary advocate.

Nozick proposes a 3-part “Entitlement Theory”.

If the world were wholly just, the following definition would exhaustively cover the subject of justice in holdings:
  1. A person who acquires a holding in accordance with the principle of justice in acquisition is entitled to that holding.
  2. A person who acquires a holding in accordance with the principle of justice in transfer, from someone else entitled to the holding, is entitled to the holding.
  3. No one is entitled to a holding except by (repeated) applications of (a) and (b).

The complete principle of distributive justice would say simply that a distribution is just if everyone is entitled to the holdings they possess under the distribution (Nozick, p.151).

The statement of the Entitlement Theory includes reference to the principles of justice in acquisition and transfer. (For details of these principles see Nozick, pp.149–182.) The principle of justice in transfer is the least controversial and is designed to specify fair contracts while ruling out stealing, fraud, etc. The principle of justice in acquisition is more complicated and more controversial. The principle is meant to govern the gaining of exclusive property rights over the material world. For the justification of these rights, Nozick takes his inspiration from John Locke’s idea that everyone ‘owns’ themselves and, by mixing one’s labors with the world, self-ownership can generate ownership of some part of the material world. However, of Locke’s mixing metaphor, Nozick legitimately asks: ‘…why isn’t mixing what I own with what I don’t own a way of losing what I own rather than a way of gaining what I don’t? If I own a can of tomato juice and spill it in the sea so its molecules... mingle evenly throughout the sea, do I thereby come to own the sea, or have I foolishly dissipated my tomato juice?’ (Nozick 1974, p.174) Nozick concludes that what is significant about mixing our labor with the material world is that in doing so, we tend to increase the value of it, so that self-ownership can lead to ownership of the external world in such cases (Nozick 1974, pp. 149–182).

The obvious objection to this claim is that it is not clear why the first people to acquire some part of the material world should be able to exclude others from it (and, for instance, be the land owners while the later ones become the wage laborers). In response to this objection, Nozick follows Locke in recognizing the need for a qualification on just acquisition. According to the Lockean Proviso, an exclusive acquisition of the external world is just, if, after the acquisition, there is ‘enough and as good left in common for others’. One of the main challenges for libertarians has been to formulate a morally plausible interpretation of this proviso. According to Nozick’s weaker version of Locke’s Proviso, “a process normally giving rise to a permanent bequeathable property right in a previously unowned thing will not do so if the position of others no longer at liberty to use the thing is thereby worsened” (Nozick, 1974, p. 178). For Nozick’s critics, his proviso is unacceptably weak. This is partly because it fails to consider the position others may have achieved under alternative distributions and thereby instantiates the morally dubious criterion of whoever is first gets the exclusive spoils. For example, one can satisfy Nozick’s proviso by ‘acquiring’ a beach and charging $1 admission to those who previously were able to use the beach for free, so long as one compensates them with a benefit they deem equally valuable, such as a clean-up or life-guarding service on the beach. However, the beach-goers would have been even better off had the more efficient organizer among them acquired the beach, charging only 50 cents for the same service, but this alternative is never considered under Nozick’s proviso (Cohen, 1995).

Will Kymlicka has given a summary of the steps in Nozick’s self-ownership argument:

  1. People own themselves.
  2. The world is initially unowned.
  3. You can acquire absolute rights over a disproportionate share of the world, if you do not worsen the condition of others.
  4. It is relatively easy, without worsening the condition of others, to acquire absolute rights over a disproportionate share of the world. Therefore:
  5. Once private property has been appropriated, a free market in capital and labor is morally required (Kymlicka 1990, p. 112).

The assessment of this argument is quite complex, but the difficulties mentioned above with the proviso call into question claims (3) and (4). The challenge for libertarians then is to find a plausible reading of (3) which will yield (4). Moreover, Nozick extends the operation of the proviso to apply both to acquisitions and transfers, compounding the problem (Nozick, 1974, p. 174).

Egalitarian leaning theorists generally have opposed Nozick’s form of libertarianism on the grounds that its implementation would lead to potentially vast material inequalities. However, a subset of egalitarians have nevertheless been attracted to the normative strength and implications of self-ownership, concerned that an unconstrained pursuit of equality could pose a danger to people’s rights over themselves and their labor. G.A. Cohen eloquently expresses this concern:

In my experience, leftists who disparage Nozick’s essentially unargued affirmation of each person’s rights over himself lose confidence in their unqualified denial of the thesis of self-ownership when they are asked to consider who has the right to decide what should happen, for example, to their own eyes. They do not immediately agree that, were eye transplants easy to achieve, it would then be acceptable for the state to conscript potential eye donors into a lottery whose losers must yield an eye to beneficiaries who would otherwise not be one-eyed but blind. (Cohen, 1995, p.70)
A strong enough commitment to self-ownership would seem to protect against such a scenario, as well as providing a justification for the view we cannot be forced to give our efforts or labor to others. So a number of egalitarian-leaning theorists who are nevertheless deeply committed to self-ownership locate the problematic aspect of Nozick’s libertarianism in the way it permits and protects particularly strong ownership rights over unequal amounts of the external world. Known as left libertarians, they combine a fundamental commitment to self-ownership with various egalitarian views of how people can come to have rights to use or own elements of the external world. A key principle in these views is that the mere possession of land or natural resources should not be permitted to generate greater wealth for some. An early version of this combination of views can be found in Henry George’s Progress and Poverty (1879), in which he argued for the value of land to be taxed while the value added by people’s work be retained by them. Contemporary left libertarians include Hillel Steiner (1994), Philippe Van Parijs (1995), Michael Otsuka (2003) and Peter Vallentyne (Vallentyne and Steiner, eds., 2000a and 2000b). In addition to their commitment to self-ownership, they believe self-ownership and equality can be rendered compatible, so long as the Lockean Proviso is given a proper and sufficient egalitarian reading. They therefore accept some form of egalitarian ownership over (unimproved, or unproduced) natural resources, but differ on the form this takes. In the work of Hillel Steiner (1994), for example, everyone is a full self-owner and also has a right to an equal share of natural resource value. Both Michael Otsuka and Peter Vallentyne defend an equal opportunity left-libertarianism, in which “those whose initial internal endowments provide less favourable effective opportunities for well-being are entitled to larger shares of natural resources” (Vallentyne, 2009, p. 149). Similarly, Otsuka argues that across a wide range of individuals who differ in their capacity to derive welfare from resources, it will be possible to “distribute initially unowned worldly resources so as to achieve equality of opportunity for welfare in a manner which is compatible with each person’s possession of an uninfringed libertarian right of self-ownership that is robust rather than merely formal” (Otsuka, 2003, see Chapter 1). Philippe Van Parijs (1995) defends an unconditional basic income for all, by combining self-ownership with the view that natural resources should be used to promote equality.

Of course, many existing holdings are the result of acquisitions or transfers which at some point did not satisfy the principles of justice for acquisitions or transfers, however these are understood. Hence, libertarians who rely on historical principles to underpin property rights must supplement these with a principle of rectification for past injustice, or at least some strategy for dealing with unjust holdings. Although Nozick does not specify this principle he does describe its purpose:

This principle uses historical information about previous situations and injustices done in them... and information about the actual course of events that flowed from these injustices, until the present, and it yields a description (or descriptions) of holdings in the society. The principle of rectification presumably will make use of its best estimate of subjunctive information about what would have occurred... if the injustice had not taken place. If the actual description of holdings turns out not to be one of the descriptions yielded by the principle, then one of the descriptions yielded must be realized. (Nozick 1974, pp. 152–153)

Nozick does not make an attempt to provide a principle of rectification. The absence of such a principle is much worse for a historical theory than for a patterned theory. Past injustices systematically undermine the justice of every subsequent distribution in historical theories. Nozick is clear that his historical theory cannot be used to evaluate the justice of actual societies until such a theory of rectification is given or no considerations of rectification of injustice could apply to justify the distribution in the actual society:

In the absence of [a full treatment of the principle of rectification] applied to a particular society, one cannot use the analysis and theory presented here to condemn any particular scheme of transfer payments, unless it is clear that no considerations of rectification of injustice could apply to justify it. (Nozick 1974, p.231)

Unfortunately for the theory, it would seem that no such treatment will ever be forthcoming because the task is, for all practical purposes, impossible. The numbers of injustices perpetrated throughout history, both within nations and between them, are enormous and the necessary details of the vast majority of injustices are unavailable. Even if the details of the injustices were available, the counterfactual causal chains could not be reliably determined. As Derek Parfit has pointed out, in a different context, even the people who would have been born would have been different (Parfit 1986). As a consequence, it is difficult to see how Nozick’s entitlement theory could provide guidance as to what the current distribution of material holdings should be or what distributions or redistributions are legitimate or illegitimate. (Indeed Nozick suggests, for instance, the Difference Principle may be the best implementation of the principle of rectification.) Although Nozick is fairly candid about this consequence, many of his supporters and critics have ignored it and have carried on a vigorous debate as though, contrary to Nozick’s own statement, his theory can be used to evaluate the justice of current economic distributions.

Classical libertarians such as Nozick usually advocate a system in which there are exclusive property rights, with the role of the government restricted to the protection of these property rights. The property rights commonly rule out taxation for purposes other than raising the funds necessary to protect property rights. One of the strongest critiques of any attempt to institute such a system of legally protected strong property rights comes, as we have seen, from Nozick’s theory itself—there seems no obvious reason to give strong legal protection to property rights which have arisen through violations of the just principles of acquisition and transfer. But putting this critique to one side for a moment, what other arguments are made in favor of exclusionary property rights?

As already noted, Nozick argues that because people own themselves and hence their talents, they own whatever they can produce with these talents. Moreover, it is possible in a free market to sell the products of exercising one’s talents. Any taxation of the income from such selling, according to Nozick, ‘institute[s] (partial) ownership by others of people and their actions and labor’ (Nozick, p. 172). People, according to this argument, have these exclusive rights of ownership. Taxation then, simply involves violating these rights and allowing some people to own (partially) other people. Moreover, it is argued, any system not legally recognizing these rights violates Immanuel Kant’s maxim to treat people always as ends in themselves and never merely as a means. The two main difficulties with this argument have been: (1) to show that self-ownership is only compatible with having such strong exclusive property rights; and (2) that a system of exclusive property rights is the best system for treating people with respect, as ends in themselves.

Nozick candidly accepts that he does not himself give a systematic moral justification of the exclusionary property rights he advocates: ‘This book does not present a precise theory of the moral basis of individual rights.’ (Nozick, p.xiv) But others have tried to provide more systematic justifications of similar rights (Lomasky, Steiner) or to develop, more fully, justifications to which Nozick alludes.

In addition to the arguments from self-ownership, and the requirement to treat people as ends in themselves, the most common other route for trying to justify exclusive property rights has been to argue that they are required for the maximization of freedom and/or liberty or the minimization of violations of these (Hayek 1960). As an empirical claim though, this appears to be false. If we compare countries with less exclusionary property rights (e.g. more taxation) with countries with more exclusionary property regimes, we see no systematic advantage in freedoms or liberties enjoyed by people in the latter countries. (Of course, we do see a difference in distribution of such freedoms or liberties. In the latter countries, the richer have more and the poorer less, while in the former they are more evenly distributed.) Now if libertarians restrict what counts as a valuable freedom/liberty (and discount other freedoms/liberties people value), it will follow that exclusionary property rights are required to maximize freedom and/or liberty or to minimize violations of these. But the challenge for these libertarians is to show why only their favored liberties and freedoms are valuable, and not those which are weakened by a system of exclusive property rights.

8. Feminist Principles

There is no one feminist conception of distributive justice; feminists defend positions across the political spectrum. Hence, feminists offer distinctive versions of all the theories considered so far as well as others. One way of thinking about what unifies many feminist theorists is an interest in what difference, if any, the practical experience of gender makes to the subject matter or study of justice; how different feminists answer this question distinguishes them from each other and from those alternative distributive principles that most inspire their thinking.

The distributive principles so far outlined, with the exception of strict egalitarianism, are often described as falling under the broad classification of liberalism—they both inform, and are the product of, the liberal democracies which have emerged over the last two centuries. Lumping them together this way, though somewhat clumsy, makes the task of understanding the emergence of feminist critiques (and the subsequent positive theories) much easier.

John Stuart Mill in The Subjection of Women (1869) gives one of the clearest early feminist critiques of the political and distributive structures of the emerging liberal democracies. His writings provided the starting point for many contemporary liberal feminists. Mill argued that the principles associated with the developing liberalism of his time required equal political status for women. The principles Mill explicitly mentions include a rejection of the aristocracy of birth, equal opportunity in education and in the marketplace, equal rights to hold property, a rejection of the man as the legal head of the household, and equal rights to political participation. Feminists inspired by Mill believe that a proper recognition of the position of women in society requires that women be given equal and the same rights as men have, and that these primarily protect their liberty and their status as equal persons under the law. Thus, government regulation should not prevent women from competing on equal terms with men in educational, professional, marketplace and political institutions. The problem for women, on the liberal feminist view, is not liberalism but the failure of society and the State to properly instantiate liberal principles.

From the point of view of other feminisms, the liberal feminist position is a conservative one, in the sense that it requires the proper inclusion for women of the rights, protections, and opportunities previously secured for men, rather than a fundamental change from the traditional liberal position. One phrase or motto around which a whole range of feminists have rallied marks a significant break with Mill’s liberalism: ‘the personal is political.’ Feminists have offered a variety of interpretations of this motto, many of which take the form of a critique of liberal theories. Mill was crucial in developing the liberal doctrine of limiting the state’s intervention in the private lives of citizens. Many contemporary feminists have argued that the resulting liberal theories of justice have fundamentally been unable to accommodate the injustices that have their origins in this ‘protected’ private sphere. This particular feminist critique has also been a primary source of inspiration for the broader multicultural critique of liberalism. The liberal commitments to government neutrality and to a protected personal sphere of liberty, where the government must not interfere, have been primary critical targets.

While issues about neutrality and personal liberty go beyond debates about distributive justice they also have application within these debates. The feminist critics recognize that liberalism correctly identifies the government as one potential source of oppression against individuals, and therefore recommends powerful political protections of individual liberty. They argue, however, that liberal theories of distributive justice are unable to address the oppression which surfaces in the so-called private sphere of government non-interference. Susan Moller Okin, for example, documents the effects of the institution of the nuclear family, arguing that the consequence of this institution is a position of systematic material and political inequality for women. Standard liberal theories, committed to neutrality in the private sphere, seem powerless to address (or sometimes even recognize) striking and lasting inequalities for women, minorities, or historically oppressed racial groups, when these are merely the cumulative effect of individuals’ free behavior. Okin and others demonstrate, for example, that women have substantial disadvantages in competing in the market because of childrearing responsibilities which are not equally shared with men. As a consequence, any theory relying on market mechanisms, including most liberal theories, will yield systems which result in women systematically having less income and wealth than men. Thus, feminists have challenged contemporary political theorists to rethink the boundaries of political authority in the name of securing a just outcome for women and other historically oppressed groups.

While the political effects of personal freedom pose a serious challenge to contemporary liberal theories of distributive justice, the feminist critiques are somewhat puzzling because, as Jean Hampton puts it, many feminists appear to complain in the name of liberal values. In other words, their claims about the fundamental flaws of liberalism at the same time leave intact the various ideals of liberty and equality which inspire the liberal theories of justice. Moreover, the task of defining feasible pathways for modifying the structure of liberal democracies without undermining their virtues and protections has proved more difficult than setting out the criticisms of liberalism. Indeed, despite a legitimate feminist worry about the effects of so-called government neutrality on women’s material status, the relative neutrality of liberal democracies compared to non-liberal societies has been one of the significant contributing factors both to the flourishing of feminist theory and to the many significant practical gains women in liberal democracies have made relative to women in other parts of the world. The challenge, being taken up by many, is to navigate both a coherent theoretical and practical path in response to the best feminist critiques available (see the entry on feminist ethics).

9. Methodology and Empirical Beliefs about Distributive Justice

How are we to go about choosing between the different distributive principles on offer, and respond to criticisms of the principles? Unfortunately, few philosophers explicitly discuss the methodology they are using. The most notable exception is John Rawls (1971, 1974) who explicitly brought the method of wide reflective equilibrium to political philosophy. This method has been brilliantly discussed by Norman Daniels over the years and the reader is strongly encouraged to refer to his entry (see reflective equilibrium) to understand how to evaluate, revise and choose between normative principles. While there is no point in reiterating the method here there are some supplementary issues worth noting.

Empirical data on the beliefs of the population about distributive justice was not available when Rawls published A Theory of Justice (Rawls 1971) but much empirical work has since been completed. Swift (1995, 1999) and Miller (1999, chaps. 3–4) have provided surveys of this literature and arguments for why those committed to the method of reflective equilibrium in distributive justice should take the beliefs of the population seriously, though not uncritically. Indeed, some go even further, arguing that the distributive decisions arising through the legitimate application of particular democratic processes might even, at least in part, constitute distributive justice (Walzer 1984). Data on people’s beliefs about distributive justice is also useful for addressing the necessary intersection between philosophical and political processes. Such beliefs put constraints on what institutional and policy reforms are practically achievable in any generation—especially when the society is committed to democratic processes.

Two final methodological issues need to be noted. The first concerns the distinctive role counterexamples play in debates about distributive justice. As noted above, the overarching methodological concern of the distributive justice literature must be, in the first instance, the pressing choice of how the benefits and burdens of economic activity should be distributed, rather than the mere uncovering of abstract truth. Principles are to be implemented in real societies with the problems and constraints inherent in such application. Given this, pointing out that the application of any particular principle will have some, perhaps many, immoral results will not by itself constitute a fatal counterexample to any distributive theory. Such counter-evidence to a theory would only be fatal if there were an alternative, or improved, version of the theory, which, if fully implemented, would yield a morally preferable society overall. So, it is at least possible that the best distributive theory, when implemented, might yield a system which still has many injustices and/or negative consequences. This practical aspect partly distinguishes the role of counterexamples in distributive justice theory from many other philosophical areas. Given that distributive justice is about what to do now, not just what to think, alternate distributive theories must, in part, compete as comprehensive systems which take into account the practical constraints we face.

The second and related methodological point is that the evaluation of alternate distributive principles requires us (and their advocates) to consider the application of the distributive principle in society. If it is uncertain or indeterminate how a particular distributive principle might in practice apply to the ordering of real societies, then this principle is not yet a serious candidate for our consideration. This is also true of principles whose implementation is practically impossible given the institutional, psychological, informational, administrative, or technical constraints of a society. Distributive justice is not an area where we can say an idea is good in theory but not in practice. If it is not good in practice, then it is not good in theory either.


Strict Egalitarianism

  • Carens, Joseph, 1981, Equality, Moral Incentives and the Market, Chicago: Chicago University Press.
  • Rawls, John, 1971, A Theory of Justice, Harvard, MA: Harvard University Press.
  • Nielsen, Kai, 1979, “Radical Egalitarian Justice: Justice as Equality,” Social Theory and Practice, 5: 209–226.

The Difference Principle

  • Cohen, G.A., 1992, “Incentives, Inequality, and Community,” in Grethe B. Peterson (ed.), The Tanner Lectures on Human Values, Salt Lake City: University of Utah Press.
  • Crocker, Lawrence, 1977, “Equality, Solidarity, and Rawls’ Maximin,” Philosophy and Public Affairs, 6: 262–266
  • Rawls, John, 1971, A Theory of Justice, Harvard, MA: Harvard University Press.
  • –––, 1974, “The Independence of Moral Theory,” Proceedings and Addresses of the American Philosophical Association, 47: 5–22, in Collected Papers, 1999, 286–302.
  • –––, 1993, Political Liberalism, New York: Columbia University Press.
  • –––, 1999, Collected Papers, Sam Freeman, (ed.), Cambridge: Harvard University Press.
  • –––, 2001, Justice as Fairness: A Restatement, Cambridge: Harvard University Press.
  • Wellbank, J. H., 1982, John Rawls and his critics: an annotated bibliography, New York: Garland.

Equality of Opportunity and Luck Egalitarianism

  • Anderson, Elizabeth, 1999, “What is the Point of Equality?”, Ethics, 109: 287–337.
  • –––, 2010, “The Fundamental Disagreement between Luck Egalitarians and Relational Egalitarians,” Canadian Journal of Philosophy (Supplementary Volume), 36: 1–23.
  • Arneson, Richard, 1990, “Liberalism, Distributive Subjectivism, and Equal Opportunity for Welfare,” Philosophy and Public Affairs, 19: 158–194.
  • –––, 2001, “Luck and Equality II,” Proceedings of the Aristotelian Society (Supplementary Volume) 75: 73–90.
  • Barry, Brian, 1988, “Equal opportunity and moral arbitrariness,” in Equal Opportunity, Norman E. Bowie (ed.), Boulder and London: Westview Press, 23–44.
  • Cohen, G. A., 1997, “Where the Action is: On the Site of Distributive Justice,” Philosophy and Public Affairs, 26(1): 3–30.
  • Daniels, Norman, 1990, “Equality of What: Welfare, Resources, or Capabilities?,” Philosophy and Phenomenological Research, 50: 273–206.
  • Dworkin, Ronald, 1981, “What is Equality? Part 1: Equality of Resources,” Philosophy and Public Affairs, 10: 185–246.
  • –––, 1981, “What is Equality? Part 2: Equality of Welfare,” Philosophy and Public Affairs, 10: 283–345.
  • –––, 2000, Sovereign Virtue, Cambridge, MA: Harvard University Press.
  • Fleurbaey, Marc., 2001, “Egalitarian Opportunities,” Law and Philosophy: An International Journal for Jurisprudence and Legal Philosophy, 20: 499–530.
  • Hurley, S. L. 2003, Justice, Luck, and Knowledge, Cambridge, MA: Harvard University Press.
  • –––, 2001, “Luck and Equality,” Proceedings of the Aristotelian Society (Supplementary Volume), 75: 51–72.
  • Knight, C. (ed.) 2011, Responsibility and Distributive Justice, Oxford: Oxford University Press.
  • Kronman, Anthony T., 1981, “Talent Pooling,” in J. Roland Pennock and John W.Chapman (eds.), Human Rights: Nomos 23, New York: New York University Press, 58–79.
  • Sen, Amartya, 1982, “Equality of What?,” in A. Sen, Choice, Welfare and Measurement, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
  • –––, 1985, Commodities and Capabilities, Amsterdam: North Holland.
  • Sher, G., 2010, “Real-World Luck Egalitarianism,” Social Philosophy and Policy, 27 (1): 218–232.
  • Steiner, H. 1997, “Choice and Circumstance,” Ratio: An International Journal of Analytic Philosophy, 10: 296–312.
  • Swift, A. 2008, “The Value of Philosophy in Nonideal Circumstances,” Social Theory and Practice: An International and Interdisciplinary Journal of Social Philosophy, 34: 363–387.
  • Vallentyne, Peter, 1997, “Self-Ownership and Equality: Brute Luck, Gifts, Universal Dominance, and Leximin,” Ethics, 107: 321–343.
  • Wolff, Jonathan, 1998, “Fairness, Respect and the Egalitarian Ethos,” Philosophy and Public Affairs, 27: 97–122.
  • –––, 2010, “Fairness, Respect and the Egalitarian Ethos Revisited,” Journal of Ethics, 14: 335–350.

Welfare-Based Principles

  • Bailey, James Wood, 1997, Utilitarianism, Institutions, and Justice, New York: Oxford University Press.
  • Elster, Jon, and John E. Roemer (eds.), 1991, Interpersonal Comparisons of Well-Being, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
  • Gaus, Gerald F., 1998, “Why All Welfare States (Including Laissez-Faire Ones) Are Unreasonable,” Social Philosophy and Policy, 15: 1–33.
  • Glover, Jonathan (ed.), 1990, Utilitarianism and Its Critics, New York: Macmillan.
  • Goodin, Robert E., 1995, Utilitarianism as a Public Philosophy, New York: Cambridge University Press.
  • Hardin, Russell, 1988, Morality within the Limits of Reason, Chicago: University of Chicago Press.
  • Rescher, Nicholas, 1966, Distributive Justice: A Constructive Critique of the Utilitarian Theory of Distribution, Indianapolis: Bobbs-Merrill.
  • Schmidtz, David and Robert E. Goodin, 1998, Social Welfare and Individual Responsibility, For and Against, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
  • Sen, Amartya, and Bernard Williams (eds.), 1982, Utilitarianism and Beyond, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
  • Schroth, J. 2008, “Distributive Justice and Welfarism in Utilitarianism,” Inquiry: An Interdisciplinary Journal of Philosophy, 51: 123–146.

Desert-Based Principles

  • Dick, James, 1975, “How to Justify a Distribution of Earnings,” Philosophy and Public Affairs, 4: 248–72.
  • Feinberg, Joel, 1970, “Justice and Personal Desert,” Doing and Deserving, Princeton, NJ: Princeton University Press, 55–94.
  • Lamont, Julian, 1997, “Incentive Income, Deserved Income, and Economic Rents,” Journal of Political Philosophy, 5: 26–46.
  • –––, 1995, “Problems For Effort-Based Distribution Principles,” Journal of Applied Philosophy, 12: 215–229.
  • –––, 1994, “The Concept of Desert in Distributive Justice,” The Philosophical Quarterly, 44: 45–64.
  • Mill, John Stuart, 1848, Principles of Political Economy, W.J. Ashley (ed.), New York: Kelly, 1965. Reprint of the 1909 edition.
  • Miller, David, 1989, Market, State, and Community, Oxford: Clarendon Press.
  • –––, 1976, Social Justice, Oxford: Clarendon Press.
  • Milne, Heather, 1986, “Desert, effort and equality,” Journal of Applied Philosophy, 3: 235–243. .
  • Pojman, L. and McLeod, O. (eds), 1999, What Do We Deserve?, New York: Oxford University Press.
  • Riley, Jonathan, 1989, “Justice Under Capitalism,” Markets and Justice, John W. Chapman (ed.), New York: New York University Press, 122–162.
  • Sadurski, Wojciech, 1985a, Giving Desert Its Due, Dordrecht: D. Reidel.
  • –––, 1985b, Giving desert its due : social justice and legal theory (Law and Philosophy Library, Volume 2), Dordrecht, Boston: D. Reidel.
  • Sher, George, Desert, Princeton, NJ: Princeton University Press, 1987.
  • Zaitchik, Alan, 1977, “On Deserving to Deserve,” Philosophy and Public Affairs, 6: 370–388.

Libertarian Principles

  • Bogart, J. H., 1985, “Lockean Provisos and State of Nature Theories,” Ethics, 95: 828–836.
  • Christman, John, 1991, “Self-Ownership, Equality, and the Structure of Property Rights,” Political Theory, 19: 28–46.
  • Cohen, G. A., 1995, Self-Ownership, Freedom, and Equality, New York: Cambridge University Press.
  • George, Henry, 1879, Progress and Poverty, 5th ed., New York, NY: Appleton and Company.
  • Hayek, Friedrich A., 1960, The Constitution of Liberty, London, Routledge and Kegan Paul.
  • Hospers, J. 1971, Libertarianism: a Political Philosophy for Tomorrow, Los Angeles: Nash.
  • Kymlicka, Will, 1990, Contemporary Political Philosophy, Oxford: Clarendon Press.
  • Lomasky, Loren E., 1987, Persons, Rights, and the Moral Community, New York: Oxford University Press.
  • Mack, E., 1995, “The Self-Ownership Proviso: A New and Improved Lockean Proviso,” Social Philosophy and Policy, 12: 186–218.
  • Narveson, J., 1988, The Libertarian Idea, Philadelphia: Temple University Press.
  • Nozick, Robert, 1974, Anarchy, State and Utopia, New York: Basic Books.
  • Otsuka, M., 2003, Libertarianism without Inequality, Oxford: Clarendon Press.
  • Schmidtz, D., 2005, “History and Pattern,” Social Philosophy and Policy, 22: 148–177.
  • Steiner, H., 1981, Liberty and Equality, Political Studies, 29: 555–569.
  • –––, 1994, An Essay on Rights, Cambridge, MA: Blackwell Publishers.
  • Vallentyne, P. and H. Steiner (eds.), 2000a, Left Libertarianism and Its Critics: The Contemporary Debate, New York: Palgrave Publishers Ltd.
  • ––– (eds.), 2000b, The Origins of Left Libertarianism: An Anthology of Historical Writings, New York: Palgrave Publishers Ltd.
  • Van Parijs, Philippe, 1995, Real Freedom for All, What (if anything) Can Justify Capitalism, Oxford: Clarendon Press

Feminist Principles

  • Okin, Susan Moller, 1991, Justice, Gender and the Family, New York: Basic Books.
  • Hampton, Jean, 1997, Political Philosophy, Boulder: Westview Press.
  • Held, Virginia, 1994, Rights and Goods: justifying social action, New York: Free Press.
  • Gatens, Moira, 1991, Feminism and Philosophy: Perspectives on Difference and Equality, Indianapolis: Indiana University Press.
  • MacKinnon, Catherine A., 2001, Sex Equality, New York: Foundation Press.
  • –––, 1987, Feminism Unmodified: Discourses of Life and Law, Cambridge, MA: Harvard University Press.
  • Pateman, Carol, 1988, The Sexual Contract, Stanford: Stanford University Press.
  • Tong, Rosemary, 1993, Feminine and Feminist Ethics, Belmont, CA: Wadsworth.

Methodology and Empirical Beliefs about Distributive Justice

  • Daniels, Norman, 1996, Justice and Justification: Reflective Equilibrium in Theory and Practice, New York: Cambridge University Press.
  • Elster, Jon, 1995, “The Empirical Study of Justice,” in Pluralism, Justice, and Equality, David Miller and Michael Walzer (eds.), New York: Oxford University Press, 81–98. .
  • Miller, David, 1999, Principles of Social Justice, Cambridge, MA: Harvard University Press.
  • Stemplowska, Zofia and Swift, Adam, 2012, “Ideal and Nonideal Theory,” in David Estlund (ed.), The Oxford Handbook of Political Philosophy, Oxford: Oxford University Press.
  • Swift, Adam, 1999, “Public Opinion and Political Philosophy: The relation between social-scientific and philosophical analyses of distributive justice,” Ethical Theory and Moral Practice: An International Forum, 2: 337–363 .
  • Swift, Adam, and Gordon Marshall, Carole Burgoyne, and David Routh, 1995, “Distributive justice: Does it matter what the people think?,” in Social Justice and Political Change., D. Mason, J. Kluegel and B. Wegener (eds.), New York: Aldine De Gruyter, 15–47 .
  • Valentini, Laura 2012, “Ideal vs. Non-ideal Theory: A Conceptual Map,” in Philosophical Compass, 7(9): 654–664.

For extensive further references on reflective equilibrium see the entry on reflective equilibrium.

Further Theories and General Reference

  • Ackerman, Bruce A., 1980, Social Justice and the Liberal State, New Haven: Yale University Press.
  • Alstott, Anne and Bruce A. Ackerman, 1999, The Stakeholder Society, New Haven: Yale University Press.
  • Arthur, John and William Shaw (eds.), 1991, Justice and Economic Distribution 2nd Ed., Englewood Cliffs, NJ: Prentice-Hall.
  • Barry, Brian, 1965, Political Argument, London: Routledge and Keagan Paul.
  • –––, 1989, Theories of Justice (Volume 1), Berkeley: University of California Press.
  • Cohen, G.A., 1997, “Where the Action Is: On the Site of Distributive Justice,” in Philosophy and Public Affairs, 26: 3–30.
  • –––, 2000, If You’re an Egalitarian, How Come You’re so Rich?, Cambridge, MA: Harvard University Press.
  • Gauthier, David, 1987, Morals by Agreement, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
  • Kymlicka, Will, 1990, Contemporary Political Philosophy, Oxford: Clarendon Press.
  • Parfit, Derek, 1986, Reasons and Persons, Oxford: Oxford University Press.
  • Roemer, John E., 1996, Theories of Distributive Justice, Cambridge, MA: Harvard University Press.
  • Scheffler, Samuel, 2001, Boundaries and Allegiances, Oxford: Oxford University Press.
  • Schmidtz, D. 2006, Elements of Justice, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
  • Stemplowska, Zofia and Swift, Adam, 2012, “Ideal and Nonideal Theory,” in David Estlund (ed.), The Oxford Handbook of Political Philosophy, Oxford: Oxford University Press.
  • Valentini, Laura 2012, “Ideal vs. Non-ideal Theory: A Conceptual Map,” in Philosophical Compass, 7(9): 654–664.
  • Walzer Michael, 1984, Spheres of Justice, New York: Basic Books.

Extended Bibliography

Extended Bibliography on Distributive Justice [Supplement]

Other Internet Resources

Current Issues in Distributive Justice

  • Center For Economic And Social Justice This site promotes a new paradigm of economics and development, the “just third way”. Provides links to numerous organisations, reports, articles and statistical data which support its paradigm.
  • Centre for Independent Studies (CIS) The CIS offers an Australian perspective on libertarian distributive justice, with its purpose to promote a market economy with high growth, an open society, individual freedom and small government in Australia.
  • Communist Party of Australia (CPA) Official website of CPA Australia. An alternative approach to current social policy issues within Australia promoting Communist Theory.
  • Crossroads Community Fund Crossroads was established in 1979 as a response to increasing social problems regarding the distribution of wealth, power and resources in Chicago, USA. This organisation attempts to address the institutional barriers that prevent people from enjoying freedom in their lives and attempts to evaluate the effectiveness of institutional changes to increase freedom.
  • Index to Economic and Social Development Statistics of the United Nations An index linking to relevant statistics associated with social and economic justice development both globally and in specific regions.
  • Guild Law Centre for Economic and Social Justice A non-profit law centre which provides advocacy, representation, legal education and technical support to empower communities, worker rights groups and individuals seeking systemic change toward economic and social justice.
  • Heritage Foundation A research and educational institution in the United States, whose stated purpose is to formulate and promote libertarian public policies based on principles of free enterprise, limited government, individual freedom, and a strong national defence.
  • Political Research Associates Home Page A non-profit organisation committed to establishing a democratic society based on progressive values and encouraging a pluralistic society. The website enables various activists to voice their opinion about the injustices of American society and supports research projects for developing ideas and informing the general public.

People in Distributive Justice

Further Resources

Copyright © 2017 by
Julian Lamont <j.lamont@uq.edu.au>
Christi Favor <c.favor@uq.edu.au>

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