Like “rationalism” and “empiricism,” “existentialism” is a term that belongs to intellectual history. Its definition is thus to some extent one of historical convenience. The term was explicitly adopted as a self-description by Jean-Paul Sartre, and through the wide dissemination of the postwar literary and philosophical output of Sartre and his associates—notably Simone de Beauvoir, Maurice Merleau-Ponty, and Albert Camus—existentialism became identified with a cultural movement that flourished in Europe in the 1940s and 1950s. Among the major philosophers identified as existentialists (many of whom—for instance Camus and Heidegger—repudiated the label) were Karl Jaspers, Martin Heidegger, and Martin Buber in Germany, Jean Wahl and Gabriel Marcel in France, the Spaniards José Ortega y Gasset and Miguel de Unamuno, and the Russians Nikolai Berdyaev and Lev Shestov. The nineteenth century philosophers, Søren Kierkegaard and Friedrich Nietzsche, came to be seen as precursors of the movement. Existentialism was as much a literary phenomenon as a philosophical one. Sartre’s own ideas were and are better known through his fictional works (such as Nausea and No Exit) than through his more purely philosophical ones (such as Being and Nothingness and Critique of Dialectical Reason), and the postwar years found a very diverse coterie of writers and artists linked under the term: retrospectively, Dostoevsky, Ibsen, and Kafka were conscripted; in Paris there were Jean Genet, André Gide, André Malraux, and the expatriate Samuel Beckett; the Norwegian Knut Hamsun and the Romanian Eugene Ionesco belong to the club; artists such as Alberto Giacometti and even Abstract Expressionists such as Jackson Pollock, Arshile Gorky, and Willem de Kooning, and filmmakers such as Jean-Luc Godard and Ingmar Bergman were understood in existential terms. By the mid 1970s the cultural image of existentialism had become a cliché, parodized in countless books and films by Woody Allen.
It is sometimes suggested, therefore, that existentialism just is this bygone cultural movement rather than an identifiable philosophical position; or, alternatively, that the term should be restricted to Sartre’s philosophy alone. Two recent books, both of them sustained attempts to engage critically and constructively with existentialism in the context of contemporary philosophical debates, adopt versions of these stances. Jonathan Webber argues that “as originally defined by Simone de Beauvoir and Jean-Paul Sartre, existentialism is the ethical theory that we ought to treat the freedom at the core of human existence as intrinsically valuable and the foundation of all other values” (2018: 2). If we stick to this definition, we can both recognize the fissures within what is called “existentialism” in the expansive sense and also see how existentialism can “ground sophisticated contributions to social psychology, philosophy of mind, moral philosophy, cultural theory, and psychotherapy” (2018: 19). Taking up the other stance, Noreen Khawaja notes the perennial difficulty in specifying just who is supposed to belong to the “movement” of existentialism, given that the term itself was either unknown to some who are conscripted or outright rejected by others. But, she argues, this is a problem only if existentialism is taken to be a movement. Though aspects of such a movement can be found in the historical record, existentialism itself “is a tradition, not a movement”; that is, “a pattern of intergenerational influence, in which later figures read and appropriated the work of earlier figures” (Khawaja 2016: 4). What animates this tradition—exemplified here by Kierkegaard, Heidegger, and Sartre—is its struggle with religion and the fact that the writing of even so-called “atheist” existentialists “feels religious to its readers” (2016: 16). Interestingly, taking either stance leads to the same place: For Khawaja, “the idea of personal authenticity [is] at the center of existential thought” (2016: 24), while for Webber, the existentialism of Sartre, Beauvoir, and Franz Fanon begins with “eudaimonist arguments for the virtue of authenticity” and finally affirms “a categorial moral imperative of authenticity” (2018: 19).
In this entry, I will employ elements of both approaches. Like Khawaja, I take existentialism to be a usefully broad term of intellectual history that can illuminate the work of philosophers and others who preceded the rise of the “movement” or rejected the label. In this sense, “existentialism” picks out a distinctive cluster of philosophical problems and a relatively distinct current of twentieth- and now twenty-first-century philosophical inquiry, one that has had significant impact on fields such as theology (through Rudolf Bultmann, Paul Tillich, Karl Barth, and others) and psychology (from Ludwig Binswanger and Medard Boss to Otto Rank, R. D. Laing, and Viktor Frankl). On the other hand, I do not think that the “tradition” of existential thought should be approached exclusively in terms of the (very real) struggle with religion that gives some of the works of existential philosophy a religious “feel” (but see Westphal 2012). I agree with Webber that there is a core of philosophical (categorial) content to existential thought that can be understood independently of the sort of religious “rhetoric” (Khawaja 2016: 16) characteristic of many of the classics of existentialism. Unlike Webber, however, I think that this categorial content is quite widely shared—beyond Sartre, Beauvoir, and Fanon—and must be understood as grounded in the phenomenological approach that so excited Sartre (see Crowell 2012b). The phenomenological approach gave philosophical shape to the basic existential insight that thinking about human existence requires new categories not found in the conceptual repertoire of ancient or modern thought; human beings can be understood neither as substances with fixed properties, nor as subjects interacting with a world of objects.
On the existential view, to understand what a human being is it is not enough to know all the truths that natural science—including the science of psychology—could tell us. The dualist who holds that human beings are composed of independent substances—“mind” and “body”—is no better off in this regard than is the physicalist who holds that human existence can be adequately explained in terms of the fundamental physical constituents of the universe. Existentialism does not deny the validity of the basic categories of physics, biology, psychology, and the other sciences (categories such as matter, causality, force, function, organism, development, motivation, and so on). It claims only that human beings cannot be fully understood in terms of them. Nor can such an understanding be gained by supplementing our scientific picture with a moral one. Categories of moral theory such as intention, blame, responsibility, character, duty, virtue, and the like do capture important aspects of the human condition, but neither moral thinking (governed by the norms of the good and the right) nor scientific thinking (governed by the norm of truth) suffices.
“Existentialism”, therefore, may be defined as the philosophical theory which holds that a further set of categories, governed by the norm of authenticity, is necessary to grasp human existence. To approach existentialism in this categorial way may seem to conceal what is often taken to be its “heart” (Kaufmann 1968: 12), namely, its character as a gesture of protest against academic philosophy, its anti-system sensibility, its flight from the “iron cage” of reason. But while it is true that the major existential philosophers wrote with a passion and urgency rather uncommon in our own time, and while the idea that philosophy cannot be practiced in the disinterested manner of an objective science is indeed central to existentialism, it is equally true that all the themes popularly associated with existentialism—dread, boredom, alienation, the absurd, freedom, commitment, nothingness, and so on—find their philosophical significance in the context of the search for a new categorial framework, together with its governing norm.
- 1. The Emergence of Existence as a Philosophical Problem
- 2. “Existence Precedes Essence”
- 3. Freedom and Value
- 4. Politics, History, Engagement
- 5. Existentialism Today
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Sartre’s existentialism drew its immediate inspiration from the work of the German philosopher, Martin Heidegger. Heidegger’s 1927 Being and Time, an inquiry into the “being that we ourselves are” (which he termed “Dasein,” a German word for existence), introduced most of the motifs that would characterize later existentialist thinking: the tension between the individual and the “public”; an emphasis on the worldly or “situated” character of human thought and reason; a fascination with liminal experiences of anxiety, death, the “nothing” and nihilism; the rejection of science (and above all, causal explanation) as an adequate framework for understanding human being; and the introduction of “authenticity” as the norm of self-identity, tied to the project of self-definition through freedom, choice, and commitment. Though in 1946 Heidegger would repudiate the retrospective labelling of his earlier work as existentialism, it is in that work that the relevant concept of existence finds its first systematic philosophical formulation.
As Sartre and Merleau-Ponty would later do, Heidegger pursued these issues with the somewhat unlikely resources of Edmund Husserl’s phenomenological method. And while not all existential philosophers were influenced by phenomenology (for instance Jaspers and Marcel), the philosophical legacy of existentialism is largely tied to the form it took as an existential version of phenomenology. Husserl’s efforts in the first decades of the twentieth century had been directed toward establishing a descriptive science of consciousness, by which he understood not the object of the natural science of psychology but the “transcendental” field of intentionality, i.e., that whereby our experience is meaningful, an experience of something as something. The existentialists welcomed Husserl’s doctrine of intentionality as a refutation of the Cartesian view according to which consciousness relates immediately only to its own representations, ideas, sensations. According to Husserl, consciousness is our direct openness to the world, one that is governed categorially (normatively) rather than causally; that is, intentionality is not a property of the individual mind but the categorial framework in which mind and world become intelligible.
A phenomenology of consciousness, then, explores neither the metaphysical composition nor the causal genesis of things, but the “constitution” of their meaning. Husserl employed this method to clarify our experience of nature, the socio-cultural world, logic, and mathematics, but Heidegger argued that he had failed to raise the most fundamental question, that of the “meaning of being” as such. In turning phenomenology toward the question of what it means to be, Heidegger insists that the question be raised concretely: it is not at first some academic exercise but a burning concern arising from life itself: the question of what it means for me to be. Existential themes take on salience when one sees that the general question of the meaning of being involves first becoming clear about one’s own being as an inquirer. According to Heidegger, the categories bequeathed by the philosophical tradition for understanding a being who can question his or her being are insufficient: traditional concepts of a substance decked out with reason, or of a subject blessed with self-consciousness, misconstrue our fundamental character, “being-in-the-world.” In his phenomenological pursuit of the categories that govern being-in-the-world, Heidegger became the reluctant father of existentialism because he drew inspiration from two seminal, though in academic circles then relatively unknown, nineteenth-century writers, Søren Kierkegaard and Friedrich Nietzsche. One can find anticipations of existential thought in many places (for instance, in Socratic irony, Augustine, Pascal, or the late Schelling), but the roots of the problem of existence in its contemporary significance lie in the work of Kierkegaard and Nietzsche.
Kierkegaard developed this problem in the context of his radical approach to Christian faith; Nietzsche did so in light of his thesis of the death of God. Subsequent existential thought reflects this difference: while some writers—such as Sartre and Beauvoir—were resolutely atheist in outlook, others—such as Heidegger, Jaspers, Marcel, and Buber—variously explored the implications of the concept “authentic existence” for religious consciousness. Though neither Nietzsche’s nor Kierkegaard’s thought can be reduced to a single strand, both took an interest in what Kierkegaard termed “the single individual.” Both were convinced that this singularity, what is most my own, “me,” could be meaningfully reflected upon while yet, precisely because of its singularity, remain invisible to traditional philosophy, with its emphasis either on what follows unerring objective laws of nature or else conforms to the universal standards of moral reason. A focus on existence thus led, in both, to unique textual strategies quite alien to the philosophy of their time.
In Kierkegaard, the singularity of existence comes to light at the moment of conflict between ethics and religious faith. Suppose it is my sense of doing God’s will that makes my life meaningful. How does philosophy conceive this meaning? Drawing here on Hegel as emblematic of the entire tradition, Kierkegaard, in his book Fear and Trembling, argues that for philosophy my life becomes meaningful when I “raise myself to the universal” by bringing my immediate (natural) desires and inclinations under the moral law, which represents my “telos” or what I ought to be. In doing so I lose my singularity (since the law holds for all) but my actions become meaningful in the sense of understandable, governed by a norm. Now a person whose sense of doing God’s will is what gives her life meaning will be intelligible just to the extent that her action conforms to the universal dictates of ethics. But what if, as in case of Abraham’s sacrifice of his son, the action contradicts what ethics demands? Kierkegaard believes both that Abraham’s life is supremely meaningful (it is not simply a matter of some immediate desire or meaningless tic that overcomes Abraham’s ethical consciousness; on the contrary, doing the moral thing is itself in this case his tempting inclination) and that philosophy cannot understand it, thus condemning it in the name of ethics. God’s command here cannot be seen as a law that would pertain to all; it addresses Abraham in his singularity. If Abraham’s life is meaningful, it represents, from a philosophical point of view, the “paradox” that through faith the “single individual is higher than the universal.” Existence as a philosophical problem appears at this point: if there is a dimension to my being that is both meaningful and yet not governed by the rational standard of morality, by what standard is it governed? For unless there is some standard, it is idle to speak of “meaning.”
To solve this problem there must be a norm inherent in singularity itself, and, in his Concluding Unscientific Postscript, Kierkegaard tries to express such a norm in his claim that “subjectivity is the truth,” an idea that prefigures the existential concept of authenticity. Abraham has no objective reason to think that the command he hears comes from God; indeed, based on the content of the command he has every reason, as Kant pointed out in Religion Within the Limits of Reason Alone, to think that it cannot come from God. His sole justification is what Kierkegaard calls the passion of faith. Such faith is, rationally speaking, absurd, a “leap,” so if there is to be any talk of truth here, it is a standard that measures not the content of Abraham’s act but the way in which he accomplishes it. To perform the movement of faith “subjectively” is to embrace the paradox as normative for me, in spite of its absurdity, rather than to seek an escape from it by means of objective textual exegesis, historical criticism, or some other strategy for translating the singularity of my situation into the universal. Because my reason cannot help here, the normative appropriation is a function of my “inwardness” or passion. In this way I “truly” become what I nominally already am. To say that subjectivity is the truth is to highlight a way of being, then, and not a mode of knowing; truth measures the attitude (“passion”) with which I appropriate, or make my own, an “objective uncertainty” (the voice of God) in a “process of highest inwardness.”
In contrast to the singularity of this movement, for Kierkegaard, stands the crowd: “the crowd is untruth.” The crowd is, roughly, public opinion in the widest sense—the ideas that a given age takes for granted; the ordinary and accepted way of doing things; the complacent attitude that comes from the conformity necessary for social life—and what condemns it to “untruth” in Kierkegaard’s eyes is the way that it insinuates itself into an individual’s own sense of who she is, relieving her of the burden of being herself: if everyone is a Christian, there is no need for me to “become” one. Since it is a measure not of knowing but of being, one can see how Kierkegaard answers those who object that his concept of subjectivity as truth is based on an equivocation: the objective truths of science and history, however well-established, are in themselves matters of indifference; they belong to the crowd. It is not insofar as truth can be established objectively that it takes on meaning, but rather insofar as it is appropriated “passionately” in its very uncertainty. To “exist” is always to be confronted with this question of meaning. The truths that matter to who one is cannot, like Descartes’ morale definitif, be something to be attained only when objective science has completed its task.
For Kierkegaard, existence emerges as a philosophical problem in the struggle to think the paradoxical presence of God; for Nietzsche it is found in the reverberations of the phrase “God is dead,” in the challenge of nihilism.
Responding in part to the cultural situation in nineteenth-century Europe—historical scholarship continuing to erode fundamentalist readings of the Bible, the growing cultural capital of the natural sciences, and Darwinism in particular—and in part driven by his own investigations into the psychology and history of moral concepts, Nietzsche sought to draw the consequences of the death of God, the collapse of any theistic support for morality. Like his contemporary, Fyodor Dostoevsky, whose character, Ivan, in The Brothers Karamazov, famously argues that if God does not exist then everything is permitted, Nietzsche’s overriding concern is to find a way to take the measure of human life in the modern world. Unlike Dostoevsky, however, Nietzsche sees a complicity between morality and the Christian God that perpetuates a life-denying, and so ultimately nihilistic, stance. Nietzsche was not the first to de-couple morality from its divine sanction; psychological theories of the moral sentiments, developed since the eighteenth century, provided a purely human account of moral normativity. But while these earlier theories had been offered as justifications of the normative force of morality, Nietzsche’s idea that behind moral prescriptions lies nothing but “will to power” undermined that authority. On the account given in On the Genealogy of Morals, the Judeo-Christian moral order arose as an expression of the ressentiment of the weak against the power exercised over them by the strong. A tool used to thwart that power, it had over time become internalized in the form of conscience, creating a “sick” animal whose will is at war with its own vital instincts. Thus Nietzsche arrived at Kierkegaard’s idea that “the crowd is untruth”: the so-called autonomous, self-legislating individual is nothing but a herd animal that has trained itself to docility and unfreedom by conforming to the “universal” standards of morality. The normative is nothing but the normal.
Yet this is not the end of the story for Nietzsche, any more than it was for Kierkegaard. If the autonomous individual has so far signified nothing but herd mentality—if moral norms arose precisely to produce such conformists—the individual nevertheless has the potential to become something else; the sick animal is “pregnant with a future.” Nietzsche saw that in the nineteenth century the “highest values” had begun to “devalue themselves.” For instance, the Christian value of truth-telling, institutionalized in the form of science, had undermined the belief in God, disenchanting the world and excluding from it any pre-given moral meaning. In such a situation the individual is forced back upon himself. On the one hand, if he is weakly constituted he may fall victim to despair in the face of nihilism, the recognition that life has no intrinsic meaning. On the other hand, for a “strong” or creative individual nihilism presents a liberating opportunity to take responsibility for meaning, to exercise creativity by “transvaluing” her values, establishing a new “order of rank.” Through his prophet, Zarathustra, Nietzsche imagined such a person as the “overman” (Übermensch), the one who teaches “the meaning of the earth” and has no need of otherworldly supports for the values he embodies. The overman represents a form of life, a mode of existence, that is to blossom from the communalized, moralized “last man” of the nineteenth century. He has understood that nihilism is the ultimate meaning of the moral point of view, its life-denying essence, and he reconfigures the moral idea of autonomy so as to release the life-affirming potential within it.
Thus, for Nietzsche, existence emerges as a philosophical problem in his distinction between moral autonomy (as obedience to the moral law) and an autonomy “beyond good and evil.” But if one is to speak of autonomy, meaning, and value at all, the mode of being beyond good and evil cannot simply be a lawless state of arbitrary and impulsive behavior. If such existence is to be thinkable there must be a standard by which success or failure can be measured. Nietzsche variously indicates such a standard in his references to “health,” “strength,” and “the meaning of the earth.” Perhaps his most instructive indication, however, comes from aesthetics, since its concept of style, as elaborated in The Gay Science, provides a norm appropriate to the singularity of existence. To say that a work of art has style is to invoke a standard for judging it, but one that cannot be specified in the form of a general law of which the work would be a mere instance. Rather, in a curious way, the norm is internal to the work. For Nietzsche, existence falls under such an imperative of style: to create meaning and value in a world from which all transcendent supports have fallen away is to give unique shape to one’s immediate inclinations, drives, and passions; to interpret, prune, and enhance according to a unifying sensibility, a ruling instinct, that brings everything into a whole that satisfies the non-conceptual, aesthetic norm of what fits, what belongs, what is appropriate.
As did Kierkegaard, then, Nietzsche uncovers an aspect of my being that can be understood neither in terms of immediate drives and inclinations nor in terms of a universal law of behavior, an aspect that is measured not in terms of an objective inventory of what I am but in terms of my way of being it. Neither Kierkegaard nor Nietzsche, however, developed this insight in a fully systematic way. That would be left to their twentieth-century heirs.
Sartre’s slogan—“existence precedes essence”—may serve to introduce what is most distinctive of existentialism, namely, the idea that no general, non-formal account of what it means to be human can be given, since that meaning is decided in and through existing itself. Existence is “self-making-in-a-situation” (Fackenheim 1961: 37). Webber (2018: 14) puts the point this way: “Classical existentialism is ... the theory that existence precedes essence,” that is, “there is no such thing as human nature” in an Aristotelian sense. A “person does not have an inbuilt set of values that they are inherently structured to pursue. Rather, the values that shape a person’s behavior result from the choices they have made” (2018: 4). In contrast to other entities, whose essential properties are fixed by the kind of entities they are, what is essential to a human being—what makes her who she is—is not fixed by her type but by what she makes of herself, who she becomes. The fundamental contribution of existential thought lies in the idea that one’s identity is constituted neither by nature nor by culture, since to “exist” is precisely to constitute such an identity. It is in light of this idea that key existential notions such as facticity, transcendence (project), alienation, and authenticity must be understood.
At first, it seems hard to understand how one can say much about existence as such. Traditionally, philosophers have connected the concept of existence with that of essence in such a way that the former signifies merely the instantiation of the latter. If “essence” designates what a thing is and “existence” that it is, it follows that what is intelligible about any given thing, what can be thought about it, will belong to its essence. It is from essence in this sense—say, human being as rational animal or imago Dei—that ancient philosophy drew its prescriptions for an individual’s way of life, its estimation of the meaning and value of existence. Having an essence meant that human beings could be placed within a larger whole, a kosmos, that provided the standard for human flourishing. Modern philosophy retained this framework even as it abandoned the idea of a “natural place” for man in the face of the scientific picture of an infinite, labyrinthine universe. In what looks like a proto-existential move, Descartes rejected the traditional essential definitions of man in favor of a radical, first-person reflection on his own existence, the “I am.” Nevertheless, he quickly reinstated the old model by characterizing his existence as that of a substance determined by an essential property, “thinking.” In contrast, Heidegger proposes that “I” am “an entity whose what [essence] is precisely to be and nothing but to be” (Heidegger 1925 [1985, 110]; 1927 [1962, 67]). Such an entity’s existing cannot, therefore, be thought as the instantiation of an essence, and consequently what it means to be such an entity cannot be determined by appeal to pre-given frameworks or systems—whether scientific, historical, or philosophical.
Of course, there is a sense in which human beings do instantiate essences, as Heidegger’s phrase already admits. But what matters for existential thought is the manner of such instantiation, the way of existing. What this means can be seen by contrasting human existence with the modes of being Heidegger terms the “available” (or “ready-to-hand,” zuhanden) and the “occurrent” (or “present-at-hand,” vorhanden). Entities of the first sort, exemplified by tools as they present themselves in use, are defined by the social practices in which they are employed, and their properties are established in relation to the norms of those practices. A saw is sharp, for instance, in relation to what counts as successful cutting. Entities of the second sort, exemplified by objects of perceptual contemplation or scientific investigation, are defined by the norms governing perceptual givenness or scientific theory-construction. An available or occurrent entity instantiates some property if that property is truly predicated of it. Human beings can be considered in this way as well. However, in contrast to the previous cases, the fact that natural and social properties can truly be predicated of human beings is not sufficient to determine what it is for me to be a human being. This, the existentialists argue, is because such properties are never merely brute determinations of who I am but are always in question. Who I am depends on what I make of my “properties”; they matter to me in a way that is impossible for merely available and occurrent entities. As Heidegger puts it, existence is “care” (Sorge): to exist is not simply to be, but to be an issue for oneself. In Sartre’s terms, while other entities exist “in themselves” (en soi) and “are what they are,” human reality is also “for itself” (pour soi) and thus is not exhausted by any of its determinations. It is what it is not and is not what it is (Sartre 1943 [1992, 112]).
Human existence, then, cannot be thought through categories appropriate to things: substance, event, process. There is something of an internal distinction in existence that undermines such attempts, a distinction that existential philosophers try to capture in the categories of “facticity” and “transcendence.” To be is to co-ordinate these opposed moments in some way, and who I am, my essence, is nothing but my manner of co-ordinating them. In this sense, human beings make themselves in situation: what I am cannot be separated from what I take myself to be. In Charles Taylor’s phrase, human beings are “self-interpreting animals” (Taylor 1985: 45), where the interpretation is constitutive of the interpreter. If such a view is not to collapse into contradiction, the notions of facticity and transcendence must be elucidated. Risking some oversimplification, they can be approached as the correlates of the two attitudes I can take toward myself: the attitude of third-person theoretical observer and the attitude of first-person practical agent.
Facticity includes all those properties that third-person investigation can establish about me: natural properties such as weight, height, and skin color; social facts such as race, class, and nationality; psychological properties such as my web of belief, desires, and character traits; historical facts such as my past actions, my family background, and my broader historical milieu; and so on. I am not originally aware of my facticity in this third-person way; rather, it is manifest in my moods as a kind of burden, the weight of “having to be.” However, I can adopt a third-person or objectifying stance toward my own being, and then these aspects of my facticity may appear precisely as that which defines or determines who I am. From an existential point of view, however, this would be an error—not because these aspects of my being are not real or factual, but because the kind of being that I am cannot be defined in factual, or third-person, terms. These elements of facticity cannot be said to belong to me in the way that the color of an apple belongs to the apple, for as belonging to me, as “determining” me, they have always already been interpreted by me. Though third-person observation can identify skin color, class, or ethnicity, the minute it seeks to identify them as mine it must contend with the distinctive character of the existence I possess. There is no sense in which facticity is both mine and merely a matter of fact, since my existence—the kind of being I am—is also defined by the stance I take toward my facticity. The ability to take such a stance is what existential philosophers call “transcendence.”
Transcendence refers to that attitude toward myself characteristic of my practical engagement in the world, the agent’s perspective. An agent is oriented by the task at hand as something to be brought about through its own will or agency. Such orientation does not take itself as a theme but loses itself in what is to be done. Thereby, things present themselves not as indifferent givens, facts, but as meaningful: salient, expedient, obstructive, and so on. To speak of “transcendence” here is to indicate that the agent “goes beyond” what simply is toward what can be: the factual—including the agent’s own properties—always emerges in light of the possible, where the possible is not a function of anonymous forces (third-person or logical possibility) but a function of the agent’s choice and decision. Just as this suddenly empty pen is either a nettlesome impediment to my finishing this article, or a welcome occasion for doing something else, depending on how I determine my behavior in relation to it, so too my own factic properties—such as irrascibility, laziness, or bourgeois workaholism—take on meaning, become motivating or normative reasons, on the basis of how I endorse or disavow them in the present action.
Existentialists tend to describe the perspective of engaged agency in terms of “choice,” and they are sometimes criticized for this. It may be—the argument runs—that I can be said to choose a course of action at the conclusion of a process of deliberation, but there seems to be no choice involved when, in the heat of the moment, I toss the useless pen aside in frustration. Can its being useless be traced back to my “choice” to be frustrated? But the point in using such language is simply to insist that in the first-person perspective of agency I cannot conceive myself as determined by anything that is available to me only in third-person terms. Behind the existentialist’s insistence that facticity and transcendence remain irreducible aspects of one and the same being is the insight that, for a being who can say “I,” the third-person perspective on who one is has no more authority than the first-person (agent’s) perspective.
Because existence is co-constituted by facticity and transcendence, the self cannot be conceived as a Cartesian ego but is embodied being-in-the-world, a self-making in situation. It is through transcendence—or what the existentialists also refer to as my “projects”—that the world is revealed, takes on meaning; but such projects are themselves factic or “situated”—not the product of some antecedently constituted “person” or intelligible character but embedded in a world that is decidedly not my representation. Because my projects are who I am in the mode of engaged agency (unlike plans that I merely represent to myself in reflective deliberation), the world in a certain sense reveals to me who I am. For reasons to be explored in the next section, the meaning of my choice is not always transparent to me. Nevertheless, because it necessarily reveals the world in a certain way, that meaning, my own “identity,” can be discovered by what Sartre calls “existential psychoanalysis.” By understanding an individual’s patterns of behavior—that is, by reconstructing the meaningful world that such behavior reveals—one can uncover the “fundamental project” or basic choice of oneself that gives distinctive shape to an individual life. Existential psychoanalysis represents a kind of compromise between the first- and third-person perspectives: like the latter, it objectifies the person and treats its open-ended practical horizons as in a certain sense closed; like the former, however, it seeks to understand the choices from the inside, to grasp the identity of the individual as a matter of the first-person meaning that haunts him, rather than as a function of inert psychic mechanisms with which the individual has no acquaintance.
The anti-Cartesian view of the self-in-situation yields the familiar existential theme of the “alienated” self, the estrangement of the self both from the world and from itself. In the first place, while it is through my projects that the world takes on meaning, the world itself is not brought into being through my projects; it retains its otherness and thus can come forth as utterly alien, as unheimlich. Sometimes translated as “uncanny,” this Heideggerian word’s stem (Heim, “home”) points to the strangeness of a world in which I precisely do not feel “at home.” (see the section on The Ideality of Values below). This experience, basic to existential thought, contrasts most sharply with the ancient notion of a kosmos in which human beings have a well-ordered place, and it connects existential thought tightly to the modern experience of a meaningless universe.
In the second place, the world includes other people, and as a consequence I am not merely the revealer of the world but something revealed in the projects of those others. Thus, who I am is not merely a function of my own projects but is also a matter of my “being-for-others.” Sartre (1992: 340-58) brings out this form of alienation in his famous analysis of “the Look.” So long as I am engaged unreflectively in a certain practice, I am nothing but that first-person perspective which constitutes things as having a distinctive salience in light of what I am doing. I am absorbed in the world and do not experience myself as having an “outside”; that is, I do not understand my action through some third-person description, as an instance of some general behavior. However, when I become aware of being looked at (that is, when my subjectivity is invaded by the subjectivity of another for whom I am merely part of the world, an item for her projects ), I become aware of having a “nature,” a “character,” of being or doing something. I am not merely looking through a keyhole; I am a voyeur. I cannot originally experience myself as something—a voyeur, for instance. Only the other can give rise to this mode of my being, a mode that I acknowledge as mine (and not merely the other’s opinion of me) in the shame in which I register it. It is because there are others in the world that I can take a third-person perspective on myself, but this reveals the extent to which I am alienated from a dimension of my being: who I am in an objective sense can be originally revealed only by the Other. This has implications for existential social theory (see the section on Sartre: Existentialism and Marxism below).
Finally, the self-understanding, or project, thanks to which the world is there for me in a meaningful way, already belongs to that world, derives from it, from the tradition or society in which I find myself. Though it is “me,” it is not me “as my own.” My very engagement in the world alienates me from my authentic possibility. This theme is brought out most clearly by Heidegger: the anti-Cartesian idea that the self is defined first of all by its practical engagement entails that this self is not properly individual but rather indisinguishable from anyone else (das Man) who engages in such practices. Such a “they-self” does what “one” does. The idea is something like this: Practices can allow things to show up as meaningful—as hammers, dollar bills, or artworks—because practices involve aims that carry with them norms, satisfaction conditions, for what shows up in them. But norms and rules, as Wittgenstein has shown, are essentially public, and that means that when I engage in a practice I must be essentially interchangeable with anyone else who does: I eat as one eats, I drive as one drives, I even protest as one protests. To the extent that my activity is to be an instance of such a practice, I must do it in the normal way. Deviations can be recognized as (perhaps salutary) deviations only against this norm, but if they deviate too much they can’t be recognized at all. Thus, if who I am is defined through existing, this “who” is normally pre-defined by what is average, by the roles available to me in my culture. The “I” that gets defined is thereby “anonymous,” or “anyone”; self-making is largely a function of not distinguishing myself from others.
If there is nevertheless good sense in talk of the singularity of my existence, it will not be as something with which one starts but as something that gets achieved in recovering oneself from alienation or lostness in the “crowd.” If the normative is first of all the normal, however, it might seem that talk about a norm for the singularity of existence, a standard for thinking about what is my ownmost just as I myself, would be incoherent. It is here that the idea of “authenticity” comes into focus.
By what standard are we to think our efforts “to be,” our manner of being a self? If such standards traditionally derive from the essence that a particular thing instantiates—this hammer is a good one if it instantiates what a hammer is supposed to be—and if there is nothing that a human being is, by its essence, supposed to be, can the meaning of existence at all be thought? Existentialism arises with the collapse of the idea that philosophy can provide substantive norms for existing, ones that specify particular ways of life. Nevertheless, there remains the distinction between what I do “as” myself and as “anyone,” so in this sense existing is something at which I can succeed or fail. Authenticity—in German, Eigentlichkeit—names that attitude in which I engage in my projects as my own (eigen).
What this means can perhaps be brought out by considering moral evaluations. In keeping my promise, I act in accord with duty; and if I keep it because it is my duty, I also act morally (according to Kant) because I am acting for the sake of duty. But existentially there is still a further evaluation to be made. My moral act is inauthentic if, in keeping my promise for the sake of duty, I do so because that is what “one” does (what “moral people” do). But I can do the same thing authentically if, in keeping my promise for the sake of duty, acting this way is something I choose as my own, something to which, apart from its social sanction, I commit myself. Similarly, doing the right thing from a fixed and stable character—which virtue ethics considers a condition of the good—is not beyond the reach of existential evaluation: such character may simply be a product of my tendency to “do what one does,” including feeling “the right way” about things and betaking myself in appropriate ways as one is expected to do. But such character might also be a reflection of my choice of myself, a commitment I make to be a person of this sort. In both cases I have succeeded in being good; only in the latter case, however, have I succeeded in being myself.
Thus the norm of authenticity refers to a kind of “transparency” with regard to my situation, a recognition that I am a being who can be responsible for who I am. In choosing in light of this norm I can be said to recover myself from alienation, from my absorption in the anonymous “one-self” that characterizes me in my everyday engagement in the world. Authenticity thus indicates a certain kind of integrity—not that of a pre-given whole, an identity waiting to be discovered, but that of a project to which I can either commit myself (and thus “become” what it entails) or else simply occupy for a time, inauthentically drifting in and out of various roles. Some writers have taken this notion a step further, arguing that the measure of an authentic life lies in the integrity of a narrative, that to be a self is to constitute a story in which a kind of wholeness prevails, to be the author of oneself as a unique individual (Nehamas 1998; Ricoeur 1992). In contrast, the inauthentic life would be one without such integrity, one in which I allow my life-story to be dictated by the world. Be that as it may, it is clear that one can commit oneself to a life of chameleon-like variety, as does Don Juan in Kierkegaard’s version of the legend. Even interpreted narratively, then, the norm of authenticity remains a formal one. As with Kierkegaard’s Knight of Faith, one cannot tell who is authentic by looking at the content of their lives.
Authenticity defines a condition on self-making: do I succeed in making myself, or will who I am merely be a function of the roles I find myself in? Thus to be authentic can also be thought as a way of being autonomous. In choosing “resolutely”—that is, in commiting myself to a certain course of action, a certain way of being in the world—I have given myself the rule that belongs to the role I come to adopt. The inauthentic person, in contrast, merely occupies such a role, and may do so “irresolutely,” without commitment. Being a father in an authentic way does not necessarily make me a better father, but what it means to be a father has become explicitly my concern. It is here that existentialism locates the singularity of existence and identifies what is irreducible in the first-person stance. At the same time, authenticity does not hold out some specific way of life as a norm; that is, it does not distinguish between the projects that I might choose. Instead, it governs the manner in which I am engaged in such projects—either as “my own” or as “what one does,” transparently or opaquely.
Thus existentialism’s focus on authenticity leads to a distinctive stance toward ethics and value-theory generally. The possibility of authenticity is a mark of my freedom, and it is through freedom that existentialism approaches questions of value, leading to many of its most recognizable doctrines.
Existentialism did not develop much in the way of a normative ethics; however, a certain approach to the theory of value and to moral psychology, deriving from the idea of existence as self-making in situation, is a distinctive mark of the existentialist tradition. In value theory, existentialists tend to emphasize the conventionality or groundlessness of values, their “ideality,” the fact that they arise entirely through the projects of human beings against the background of an otherwise meaningless and indifferent world. Existential moral psychology emphasizes human freedom and focuses on the sources of mendacity, self-deception, and hypocrisy in moral consciousness. The familiar existential themes of anxiety, nothingness, and the absurd must be understood in this context. At the same time, there is deep concern to foster an authentic stance toward human, groundless, values without which no project is possible, a concern that gets expressed in the notions of “engagement” and “commitment.”
As a predicate of existence, the concept of freedom is not initially established on the basis of arguments against determinism; nor is it taken, in Kantian fashion, simply as a given of practical self-consciousness. Rather, it is located in the breakdown of direct practical activity. The “evidence” of freedom is a matter neither of theoretical nor of practical consciousness but arises from the self-understanding that accompanies a certain mood into which I may fall, namely, anxiety (Angst, angoisse). Both Heidegger and Sartre believe that phenomenological analysis of the kind of intentionality that belongs to moods does not merely register a passing modification of the psyche but reveals fundamental aspects of the self. Fear, for instance, reveals some region of the world as threatening, some element in it as a threat, and myself as vulnerable. In anxiety, as in fear, I grasp myself as threatened or as vulnerable; but unlike fear, anxiety has no direct object, there is nothing in the world that is threatening. This is because anxiety pulls me altogether out of the circuit of those projects thanks to which things are there for me in meaningful ways; I can no longer “gear into” the world. And with this collapse of my practical immersion in roles and projects, I also lose the basic sense of who I am that is provided by these roles. In thus robbing me of the possibility of practical self-identification, anxiety teaches me that I do not coincide with anything that I factically am. Further, since the identity bound up with such roles and practices is always typical and public, the collapse of this identity reveals an ultimately first-personal aspect of myself that is irreducible to das Man. As Heidegger puts it, anxiety testifies to a kind of “existential solipsism.” It is this reluctant, because disorienting and dispossessing, retreat into myself in anxiety that yields the existential figure of the outsider, the isolated one who “sees through” the phoniness of those who, unaware of what the breakdown of anxiety portends, live their lives complacently identifying with their roles as though these roles thoroughly defined them. While this “outsider” stance may be easy to ridicule as adolescent self-absorption, it is also solidly supported by the phenomenology (or moral psychology) of first-person experience.
The experience of anxiety also yields the existential theme of the absurd, a version of what was previously introduced as alienation from the world (see the section on Alienation above). So long as I am gearing into the world practically, in a seamless and absorbed way, things present themselves as meaningfully co-ordinated with the projects in which I am engaged; they show me the face that is relevant to what I am doing. But the connection between these meanings and my projects is not itself something that I experience. Rather, the hammer’s usefulness, its value as a hammer, appears simply to belong to it in the same way that its weight or color does. So long as I am practically engaged, in short, all things appear to have reasons for being, and I, correlatively, experience myself as fully at home in the world. The world has an order that is largely transparent to me (even its mysteries are grasped simply as something for which there are reasons that are there “for others,” for “experts,” merely beyond my limited horizon). In the mood of anxiety, however, it is just this character that fades from the world. Because I am no longer practically engaged, the meaning that had previously inhabited the thing as the density of its being now stares back at me as a mere name, as something I “know” but which no longer claims me. As when one repeats a word until it loses meaning, anxiety undermines the taken-for-granted sense of things. They become absurd. Things do not disappear, but all that remains of them is the blank recognition that they are—an experience that informs a central scene in Sartre’s novel Nausea. As Roquentin sits in a park, the root of a tree loses its character of familiarity until he is overcome by nausea at its utterly alien character, its being en soi. While such an experience is no more genuine than my practical, engaged experience of a world of meaning, it is no less genuine either. An existential account of meaning and value must recognize both possibilities (and their intermediaries). To do so is to acknowledge a certain absurdity to existence: though reason and value have a foothold in the world (they are not, after all, my arbitrary invention), they nevertheless lack any ultimate foundation. Values are not intrinsic to being, and at some point reasons give out.
Another term for the groundlessness of the world of meaning is “nothingness.” Heidegger introduced this term to indicate the kind of self- and world-understanding that emerges in anxiety: because my practical identity is constituted by the practices I engage in, when these collapse I “am” not anything. In a manner of speaking I am thus brought face-to-face with my own finitude, my “death,” as the possibility in which I am no longer able to be anything. This experience of my own death, or “nothingness,” in anxiety can act as a spur to authenticity: I come to see that I “am” not anything but must “make myself be” through my choice. In commiting myself in the face of death—that is, aware of the nothingness of my identity if not supported by me right up to the end—the roles that I have hitherto thoughtlessly engaged in as one does now become something that I myself own up to, become responsible for. Heidegger termed this mode of self-awareness—awareness of the ultimate nothingness of my practical identity—“freedom,” and Sartre developed this existential concept of freedom in rich detail. This is not to say that Heidegger’s and Sartre’s views on freedom are identical. Heidegger, for instance, will emphasize that freedom is always “thrown” into an historical situation from which it draws its possibilities, while Sartre (who is equally aware of the “facticity” of our choices) will emphasize that such “possibilities” nevertheless underdetermine choice. But the theory of radical freedom that Sartre develops is nevertheless directly rooted in Heidegger’s account of the nothingness of my practical identity.
Sartre (1943 [1992, 70]) argues that anxiety provides a lucid experience of that freedom which, though often concealed, characterizes human existence as such. For him, freedom is the dislocation of consciousness from its object, the fundamental “nihilation” or negation by means of which consciousness can grasp its object without losing itself in it: to be conscious of something is to be conscious of not being it, a “not” that arises in the very structure of consciousness as being for-itself. Because “nothingness” (or nihilation) is just what consciousness is, there can be no objects in consciousness, but only objects for consciousness. This means that consciousness is radically free, since its structure precludes that it either contain or be acted on by things. For instance, because it is not thing-like, consciousness is free with regard to its own prior states. Motives, instincts, psychic forces, and the like cannot be understood as inhabitants of consciousness that might infect freedom from within, inducing one to act in ways for which one is not responsible; rather, they can exist only for consciousness as matters of choice. I must either reject their claims or avow them. For Sartre, the ontological freedom of existence entails that determinism is an excuse before it is a theory: though through its structure of nihilation consciousness escapes that which would define it—including its own past choices and behavior—there are times when I may wish to deny my freedom. Thus I may attempt to constitute these aspects of my being as objective “forces” which hold sway over me in the manner of relations between things. This is to adopt the third-person stance in which what is originally structured in terms of freedom appears as a causal property of myself. I can try to look upon myself as the Other does, but as an excuse this flight from freedom is shown to fail, according to Sartre, in the experience of anguish.
For instance, Sartre writes of a gambler who, after losing all and fearing for himself and his family, retreats to the reflective behavior of resolving never to gamble again. This motive thus enters into his facticity as a choice he has made; and, as long as he retains his fear, his living sense of himself as being threatened, it may appear to him that this resolve actually has causal force in keeping him from gambling. However, one evening he confronts the gaming table and is overcome with anguish at the recognition that his resolve, while still “there,” retains none of its power: it is an object for consciousness but is not (and never could have been) something in consciousness that was determining his actions. In order for it to influence his behavior he must avow it afresh, but this is just what he cannot do; indeed, just this is what he hoped the original resolve would spare him from having to do. He will have to “remake” the self who was in the original situation of fear and threat. At this point, perhaps, he will try to relieve himself of the anguish of freedom by giving in to the urge to gamble and chalking it up to “deeper” motives that overcame the initial resolve, problems from his childhood perhaps. But anguish can recur with regard to this strategy as well—for instance, if he needs a loan to continue gambling and must convince someone that he is “as good as his word.” The possibilities for self-deception in such cases are endless.
As Sartre points out in great detail, anguish, as the consciousness of freedom, is not something that human beings welcome; rather, we seek stability, identity, and adopt the language of freedom only when it suits us: those acts are considered by me to be my free acts which exactly match the self I want others to take me to be. We are “condemned to be free,” which means that we can never simply be who we are but are separated from ourselves by the nothingness of having perpetually to re-choose, or re-commit, ourselves to what we do. Characteristic of the existentialist outlook is the idea that we spend much of lives devising strategies for denying or evading the anguish of freedom. One of these strategies is “bad faith.” Another is the appeal to values.
The idea that freedom is the origin of value—where freedom is defined not in terms of acting rationally (Kant) but rather in existential terms, as choice and transcendence—is the idea perhaps most closely associated with existentialism. So influential was this general outlook on value that Karl-Otto Apel (1973: 235) came to speak of a kind of “official complementarity of existentialism and scientism” in Western philosophy, according to which what can be justified rationally falls under the “value-free objectivism of science” while all other validity claims become matters for an “existential subjectivism of religious faith and ethical decisions.” Positivism attempted to provide a theory of “cognitive meaning” based on what it took to be the inner logic of scientific thought, and it relegated questions of value to cognitive meaninglessness, reducing them to issues of emotive response and subjective preference. While it does not explain evaluative language solely as a function of affective attitudes, existential thought, like positivism, denies that values can be grounded in being—that is, that they can become the theme of a scientific investigation capable of distinguishing true (or valid) from false values. In this regard Sartre speaks of the “ideality” of values, by which he means not that they have some sort of timeless validity but that they have no real authority and cannot be used to underwrite or justify my behavior. For Sartre, “values derive their meaning from an original projection of myself which stands as my choice of myself in the world.” But if that is so, then I cannot, without circularity, appeal to values in order to justify this very choice: “I make my decision concerning them—without justification and without excuse” (Sartre 1943 [1992, 78]). This so-called “decisionism” has been a hotly contested legacy of existentialism and deserves a closer look here.
How is it that values are supposed to be grounded in freedom? By “value” Sartre means those aspects of my experience that do not merely causally effectuate something but rather make a claim on me: I do not just see the homeless person but encounter him as “to be helped”; I do not just hear the other’s voice but register “a question to be answered honestly”; I do not simply happen to sit quietly in church but “attend reverently”; I do not merely hear the alarm clock but am “summoned to get up.” Values, then, as Sartre writes, appear with the character of demands and as such they “lay claim to a foundation” or justification (Sartre 1943 [1992, 76]). Why ought I help the homeless, answer honestly, sit reverently, or get up? Sartre does not claim that there is no answer to these questions but only that the answer depends, finally, on my choice of “myself”, which cannot in turn be justfied by appeal to a value. As he puts it, “value derives its being from its exigency and not its exigency from its being.” The exigency of value cannot be grounded in being itself, since it would thereby lose its character as an ought; it would “cease even to be value” since it would have the kind of exigency (contrary to freedom) possessed by a mere cause. Thus, against then-current value-theoretical intuitionism, Sartre denies that value can “deliver itself to a contemplative intuition which would apprehend it as being value and thereby would derive from it its right over my freedom.” Instead, “it can be revealed only to an active freedom which makes it exist as a value by the sole fact of recognizing it as such” (Sartre 1943 [1992. 76]).
For instance, I do not grasp the exigency of the alarm clock (its character as a demand) in a kind of disinterested perception but only in the very act of responding to it, of getting up. If I fail to get up the alarm has, to that very extent, lost its exigency. Why must I get up? At this point I may attempt to justify its demand by appeal to other elements of the situation with which the alarm is bound up: I must get up because I must go to work. From this point of view the alarm’s demand appears—and is—justified, and such justification will often suffice to get me going again. But the question of the foundation of value has simply been displaced: now it is my job that, in my active engagement, takes on the unquestioned exigency of a demand or value. But it too derives its being as a value from its exigency—that is, from my unreflective engagement in the overall practice of going to work. Ought I go to work? Why not be “irresponsible”? If a man’s got to eat, why not rather take up a life of crime? If these questions have answers that are themselves exigent it can only be because, at a still deeper level, I am engaged as having chosen myself as a person of a certain sort: respectable, responsible. From within that choice there is an answer about what I ought to do, but outside that choice there is none—why should I be respectable, law-abiding?—for it is only because some choice has been made that anything at all can appear as compelling, as making a claim on me. Only if I am at some level engaged do values (and so justification in terms of them) appear at all. The more I pull out of engagement toward reflection on, and questioning of, my situation, the more I am threatened by ethical anguish—“which is the recognition of the ideality of values” (Sartre 1943 [1992, 76]). And, as with all anguish, I do not escape this situation by discovering the true order of values but by plunging back into action. If the idea that values are without foundation in being can be understood as a form of nihilism, the existential response to this condition of the modern world is to point out that meaning, value, is not first of all a matter of contemplative theory but a consequence of engagement and commitment.
Thus value judgments can be justified, but only relative to some concrete and specific project. The “pattern of behavior” of the typical bourgeois defines the meaning of “respectability” (Sartre 1943 [1992, 77]), and so it is true of some particular bit of behavior that it is either respectable or not. For this reason I can be in error about what I ought to do. It may be that something that appears exigent during the course of my unreflective engagement in the world is something that I ought not to give in to. If, thanks to my commitment to the Resistance, a given official appears to me as to be shot, I might nevertheless be wrong to shoot him—if, for instance, the official was not who I thought he was, or if killing him would in fact prove counter-productive given my longer-term goals. Sartre’s fictional works are full of explorations of moral psychology of this sort. But I cannot extend these “hypothetical” justifications to a point where some purely theoretical consideration of my obligations—whether derived from the will of God, from Reason, or from the situation itself—could underwrite my freedom in such a way as to relieve it of responsibility. For in order for such considerations to count I would have to make myself the sort of person for whom God’s will, abstract Reason, or the current situation is decisive. For existentialists like Sartre, then, I am “the one who finally makes values exist in order to determine [my] actions by their demands.”
Commitment—or “engagement”—is thus ultimately the basis for an authentically meaningful life, that is, one that answers to the existential condition of being human and does not flee that condition by appeal to an abstract system of reason or divine will. Yet though I alone can commit myself to some way of life, some project, I am never alone when I do so; nor do I do so in a social, historical, or political vacuum. If transcendence represents my radical freedom to define myself, facticity—that other aspect of my being—represents the situated character of this self-making. Because freedom as transcendence undermines the idea of a stable, timeless system of moral norms, it is little wonder that existential philosophers (with the exception of Simone de Beauvoir) devoted scant energy to questions of normative moral theory. However, because this freedom is always socially (and thereby historically) situated, it is equally unsurprising that their writings are greatly concerned with how our choices and commitments are concretely contextualized in terms of political struggles and historical reality.
For the existentialists, engagement is the source of meaning and value; in choosing myself I in a certain sense make my world. On the other hand, I always choose myself in a context where there are others doing the same thing, and in a world that has always already been there. In short, my acting is situated, both socially and historically. Thus, in choosing myself in the first-person singular, I am also choosing in such a way that a first-person plural, a “we,” is simultaneously constituted. Such choices make up the domain of social reality; they fit into a pre-determined context of roles and practices that go largely unquestioned and may be thought of as a kind of collective identity. In social action my identity takes shape against a background (the collective identity of the social formation) that remains fixed. On the other hand, it can happen that my choice puts this social formation or collective identity itself into question, and so who I am to be is thus inseparable from the question of who we are to be. Here the first-person plural is itself the issue, and the action that results from such choices constitutes the field of the political.
If authenticity is the category by which I am able to think about what it means to “exist,” then the account of authenticity cannot neglect the social, historical, and political aspects of that existence. Thus it is not merely because twentieth-century existentialism flourished at a time when European history appeared to collapse and political affairs loomed especially large that existential philosophers devoted much attention to these matters; rather, the demand for an account of the “situation” stems from the very character of existence itself, which, unlike the classical “rational subject,” is what it is only in relation to its “time.” This is not to say, however, that existential philosophers are unanimous in their account of the importance of historical factors or in their estimation of the political in relation to other aspects of existence. Emmanuel Levinas, for example, whose early phenomenological work belonged within the orbit of existential philosophy, opposed to the “horizontal” temporality of political history a “vertical” or eschatological temporality that radically challenged all historical meaning, while Sartre, in contrast, produced a version of Marxist historical materialism in which existentialism itself became a mere ideology. But we cannot stop to examine all such differences here. Instead, we shall look at the positions of Heidegger and Sartre, who provide opposing examples of how an authentic relation to history and politics can be understood.
For Heidegger, to exist is to be historical. This does not mean that one simply finds oneself at a particular moment in history, conceived as a linear series of events. Rather, it means that selfhood has a peculiar temporal structure that is the origin of that “history” which subsequently comes to be narrated in terms of a series of events. Existential temporality is not a sequence of instants but instead a unified structure in which the “future” (that is, the possibility aimed at in my project) recollects the “past” (that is, what no longer needs to be done, the completed) so as to give meaning to the “present” (that is, the things that take on significance in light of what currently needs doing). To act, therefore, is, in Heidegger’s terms, to “historize” (geschehen), to constitute something like a narrative unity, with beginning, middle, and end, that does not so much take place in time as provide the condition for linear time. To exist “between birth and death,” then, is not merely to be present in each of a discrete series of temporal instants but to constitute oneself in the unity of a history, and an authentic existence is one in which the projects that give shape to existence are ones to which I commit myself in light of this history. Though it belongs to, and defines, a “moment,” choice cannot be simply “of the moment”; to be authentic I must understand my choice in light of the potential wholeness of my existence.
That this choice has a political dimension stems from the fact that existence is always being-with-others. Though authenticity arises on the basis of my being alienated, in anxiety, from the claims made by norms belonging to the everyday life of das Man, any concrete commitment that I make in the movement to recover myself will enlist those norms in two ways. First, what I commit myself to will always be derived from (though not reducible to) some “possibility of Dasein that has been there” (Heidegger 1927 [1962, 438]): I cannot make my identity from whole cloth; I will always understand myself in terms of some way of existing that has been handed down within my tradition. I “choose my hero” (Heidegger 1927 [1962, 437]) by, for instance, committing myself to a philosophical life, which I understand on the model of Socrates, or to a religious life, which I understand on the model of St. Francis. The point is that I must understand myself in terms of something, and these possibilities for understanding come from the historical heritage and the norms that belong to it. Heidegger thinks of this historical dimension as a kind of “fate” (Schicksal): not something inevitable that controls my choice but something that, inherited from my historical situation, claims me, holds a kind of authority for me.
The second way in which the everyday norms of das Man are enlisted in authentic choice stems from the fact that when I commit myself to my “fate” I do so “in and with my ‘generation’” (Heidegger 1927 [1962, 436]). The idea here seems roughly to be this: To opt for a way of going on is to affirm the norms that belong to it; and because of the nature of normativity, it is not possible to affirm norms that would hold only for me. There is a kind of publicity and scope in the normative such that, when I choose, I exemplify a standard for others as well. Similarly, Heidegger holds that the sociality of my historizing restricts what can be a genuine “fate” or choice for me. Acting is always with others—more specifically, with a “community” or a “people” (Volk)—and together this “co-historizing” responds to a “destiny” (Geschick) which has guided our fates in advance (Heidegger 1927 [1962, 436]). Not everything is really possible for us, and an authentic choice must strive to respond to the claim that history makes on the people with whom one belongs, to seize its “destiny.” Along this communitarian axis, then, existential historicality can open out onto the question of politics: who are “we” to be?
Heidegger suggests that it was this concept of historicality that underwrote his own political engagement during the period of National Socialism in Germany. Disgusted with the political situation in Weimar Germany and characterizing it as especially irresolute or inauthentic, Heidegger looked upon Hitler’s movement as a way of recalling the German people back to their “ownmost” possibility—i.e., a way for Germany to constitute itself authentically as an alternative to the political models of the Soviet Union and the United States. Heidegger’s choice to intervene in university politics at this time was thus both a choice of himself—in which he chose his hero: Plato’s “philosopher-king” (see Arendt 1978)—and a choice for his “generation.” Much is controversial about Heidegger’s engagement for National Socialism (not least whether he drew the appropriate consequences from his own concept of authenticity), but it provides a clear example of a kind of existential politics that depends on an ability to “tell time”—that is, to sense the imperatives of one’s factic historical situation. Heidegger later became very suspicious of this sort of existential politics. Indeed, for the idea of authenticity as resolute commitment he substituted the idea of “releasement” (Gelassenheit) and for engagement the stance of “waiting.” He came to believe that the problems that face us (notably, the dominance of technological ways of thinking) have roots that lie deeper than can be addressed through politics directly. He thus famously denied that democracy was sufficient to deal with the political crisis posed by technology, asserting that “only a god can save us” (Heidegger 1966 [1981, 55, 57]). But even here, in keeping with the existential notion of historicity, Heidegger’s recommendations turn on a reading of history, of the meaning of our time.
A very different reading, and a very different recommendation, can be found in the work of Sartre. The basis for Sartre’s reading of history, and his politics, was laid in the section of Being and Nothingness that describes the birth of the social in the “Look”(le regard) of the other. In making me an object for his projects, the other alienates me from myself, displaces me from the subject position (the position from which the world is defined in its meaning and value) and constitutes me as something. Concretely, what I am constituted “as” is a function of the other’s project and not something that I can make myself be. I am constituted as a “Frenchman” in and through the hostility emanating from that German; I am constituted as a “man” in this woman’s resentment; I am constituted as a “Jew” on the basis of the other’s anti-semitism; and so on. This sets up a dimension of my being that I can neither control nor disavow, and my only recourse is to wrench myself away from the other in an attempt to restore myself to the subject-position. For this reason, on Sartre’s model, social reality is in perpetual conflict—an Hegelian dialectic in which, for ontological reasons, no state of mutual recognition can ever be achieved. The “we”—the political subject—is always contested, conflicted, unstable.
But this instability does have a certain structure, one which Sartre, steeped in the Marxism of inter-war French thought (Alexandre Kojève, Jean Hyppolite), explored in terms of a certain historical materialism. For social relations take place not only between human beings but also within institutions that have developed historically and that enshrine relations of power and domination. Thus the struggle over who will take the subject position is not carried out on equal terms. As Simone de Beauvoir demonstrated in detail in her book, The Second Sex, the historical and institutional place of women is defined in such a way that they are consigned to a kind of permanent “object” status—they are the “second” sex, since social norms are defined in male terms. This being so, a woman’s struggle to develop self-defining projects is constrained by a permanent institutional “Look” that already defines her as “woman,” whereas a man need not operate under constraints of gender; he feels himself to be simply “human,” pure subjectivity. Employing similar insights in reflection on the situations of racial and economic oppression, Sartre sought a way to derive political imperatives in the face of the groundlessness of moral values entailed by his view of the ideality of values.
At first, Sartre argued that there was one value—namely freedom itself—that did have a kind of universal authority. To commit oneself to anything is also always to commit oneself to the value of freedom. In “Existentialism is a Humanism” Sartre tried to establish this by way of a kind of transcendental argument, but he soon gave up that strategy and pursued the more modest one of claiming that the writer must always engage “on the side of freedom.” According to the theory of “engaged literature” expounded in What is Literature?, in creating a literary world the author is always acting either to imagine paths toward overcoming concrete unfreedoms such as racism and capitalist exploitation, or else closing them off. In the latter case, he contradicts himself, since the very idea of writing presupposes the freedom of the reader, and that means, in principle, the whole of the reading public. Whatever the merits of this argument, it does suggest the political value to which Sartre remained committed throughout his life: the value of freedom as self-making.
This commitment finally led Sartre to hold that existentialism itself was only an “ideological” moment within Marxism, which he termed “the one philosophy of our time which we cannot go beyond” (Sartre 1960 [1968, xxxiv]). As this statement suggests, Sartre’s embrace of Marxism was a function of his sense of history as the factic situation in which the project of self-making takes place. Because existing is self-making (action), philosophy—including existential philosophy—cannot be understood as a disinterested theorizing about timeless essences but is always a form of engagement, a diagnosis of the past and a projection of norms appropriate to a different future in light of which the present takes on significance. It therefore always arises from the historical-political situation and is a way of intervening in it. Marxism, like existentialism, makes this necessarily practical orientation of philosophy explicit.
From the beginning existentialism saw itself in this activist way, providing the basis for the most serious disagreements among French existentialists such as Sartre, Merleau-Ponty, and Camus, many of which were fought out in the pages of the journal founded by Sartre and Merleau-Ponty, Les Temps Modernes). But the later Sartre came to hold that a philosophy of self-making could not content itself with highlighting the situation of individual choice; an authentic political identity could only emerge from a theory that situated such choice in a practically oriented analysis of its concrete situation. Thus it appeared to him that the “ideology of existence” was itself merely an alienated form of the deeper analysis of social and historical reality provided by Marx’s dialectical approach. In focusing on the most important aspects of the material condition in which the existential project of self-making takes place—namely, economic relations under conditions of scarcity—Marx’s critique of capital offered a set of considerations that no “philosophy of freedom” could ignore, considerations that would serve to orient political engagement until such time as “there will exist for everyone a margin of real freedom beyond the production of life” (Sartre 1968: 34). Marxism is unsurpassable, therefore, because it is the most lucid theory of our alienated situation of concrete unfreedom, oriented toward the practical-political overcoming of that unfreedom.
Sartre’s relation to orthodox Marxism was marked by tension, however, since he held that existing Marxism had abandoned the promise of its dialectical approach to social reality in favor of a dogmatic “apriorism” that subsumed historical reality under a blanket of lifeless abstractions. He thus undertook his Critique of Dialectical Reason to restore the promise of Marxism by reconceiving its concept of praxis in terms of the existential notion of project. What had become a rigid economic determinism would be restored to dialectical fluidity by recalling the existential doctrine of self-making: it is true that man is “made” by history, but at the same time he is making that very history. This attempt to “reconquer man within Marxism” (Sartre 1960 [1968, 83])—i.e., to develop a method which would preserve the concrete details of human reality as lived experience—was not well received by orthodox Marxists. Sartre’s fascination with the details of Flaubert’s life, or the life of Baudelaire, smacked too much of “bourgeois idealism.” But we see here how Sartre’s politics, like Heidegger’s, derived from his concept of history: there are no iron-clad laws that make the overthrow of capitalism the inevitable outcome of economic forces; there are only men in situation who make history as they are made by it. Dialectical materialism is the unsurpassable philosophy of those who choose, who commit themselves to, the value of freedom. The political claim that Marxism has on us, then, would rest upon the ideological enclave within it: authentic existence as choice.
Authentic existence thus has an historical, political dimension; all choice will be attentive to history in the sense of contextualizing itself in some temporally narrative understanding of its place. But even here it must be admitted that what makes existence authentic is not the correctness of the narrative understanding it adopts. Authenticity does not depend on some particular substantive view of history, some particular theory or empirical story. From this point of view, the substantive histories adopted by existential thinkers as different as Heidegger and Sartre should perhaps be read less as scientific accounts, defensible in third-person terms, than as articulations of the historical situation from the perspective of what that situation is taken to demand, given the engaged commitment of their authors. They stand, in other words, less as justifications for their authors’ existential and political commitments than as themselves a form of politics: invitations to others to see things as the author sees them, so that the author’s commitment to going on in a certain way will come to be shared.
As a cultural movement, existentialism belongs to the past. As a philosophical inquiry that introduced a new norm, authenticity, for understanding what it means to be human—a norm tied to a distinctive, post-Cartesian concept of the self as practical, embodied, being-in-the-world—existentialism has continued to play an important role in contemporary thought in both the continental and analytic traditions. The Society for Phenomenology and Existential Philosophy and societies devoted to Heidegger, Sartre, Merleau-Ponty, Jaspers, Beauvoir, and other existential philosophers, provide a forum for ongoing work—both of a historical, scholarly nature and of more systematic focus—that continues what Khawaja called the “tradition” of existentialism, often bringing it into confrontation with more recent movements such as structuralism, deconstruction, hermeneutics, and feminism.
In the area of gender studies, Judith Butler (1990) draws importantly on existential sources, as does Lewis Gordon (1995) in the area of race theory (see also Bernasconi 2003). Matthew Ratcliffe (2008) and Kevin Aho (2019) develop existential approaches to psychopathology. Interest in a narrative conception of self-identity—for instance, in the work of Charles Taylor (1999), Paul Ricoeur, David Carr (1986), or Charles Guignon—has its roots in the existential revision of Hegelian notions of temporality and its critique of rationalism. Hubert Dreyfus (1979) developed an influential criticism of the Artificial Intelligence program drawing essentially upon the existentialist idea, found especially in Heidegger and Merleau-Ponty, that the human world, the world of meaning, must be understood first of all as a function of our embodied practices and cannot be represented as a logically structured system of representations. Calling for a “new existentialism,” John Haugeland (1998) has explored the role of existential commitment in scientific practices as truth-tracking practices. In metaphysics, Markus Gabriel (2018) has adopted the term “neo-existentialism” to describe a non-naturalistic view of mind in the “universe” that does away with idealism’s “ontological asymmetry” in favor of a view in which mind is defined as the struggle to make sense of the fact that it is not simply part of the universe, and that the familiar “worlds” it inhabits in this struggle do not make up a whole. In a series of books, Michael Gelven (e.g., 1990, 1997) has reflected upon the distinctions between existential, moral, and epistemological or logical dimensions of experience, showing how the standards appropriate to each intertwine, without reducing to any single one. A revival of interest in moral psychology finds many writers who are taking up the question of self-identity and responsibility in ways that recall the existential themes of self-making and choice—for instance, Christine Korsgaard (1996) appeals crucially to notions of “self-constitution” and “practical identity”; Richard Moran (2001) emphasizes the connection between self-avowal and the first-person perspective in a way that derives in part from Sartre; and both Thomas Nagel and Bernard Williams pursued the existentialist line that connects meaning to the finitude of our existence. Even if such writers often proceed with more confidence in the touchstone of rationality than did the classical existentialists, their work cultivates the terrain first glimpsed by the latter. And today, as we have noted, we can find fully-rounded arguments for an existentialist ethics in writers like Webber and McMullin.
In addition, after years of being out of fashion in France, existential motifs have once again become prominent in the work of leading thinkers. Foucault’s embrace of a certain concept of freedom, and his exploration of the “care of the self,” recall debates within existentialism, as does Derrida’s work on religion without God and his reflections on the concepts of death, choice, and responsibility. In very different ways, the books by Cooper (1999) and Alan Schrift (1995) suggest that a re-appraisal of the legacy of existentialism is an important agenda item of contemporary philosophy. There are, in fact, reasons to think that such a re-evaluation is currently underway. Reynolds (2006), for instance, concludes his introduction to existentialism with a consideration of how post-structuralists such as Derrida, Deleuze, and Foucault extend certain reflections found in Sartre, Camus, and Heidegger, while Reynolds (2004) does the same, in more detail, for Derrida and Merleau-Ponty. Several further publications take up the challenge of bringing existential thought into dialogue with items on the contemporary philosophical agenda. Edward Baring (2011) exhumes the historical relation between Derrida and existentialism and finds a kind of “‘Christian’ existentialism” in Derrida’s work prior to 1952, traces of which are discernible in his later thinking. The collection edited by Judaken and Bernasconi (2012) explores the historical context of existentialist writings informed by contemporary critiques of canonization. Feminist thought has led to an explosion of work that re-evaluates the Beauvoir/Sartre relationship and its significance for the origins of existentialism itself, for instance Kruks (1990, 1912), Bergoffen (1997), Arp (2001), Heinämaa (2003), Deutscher (2008) and Simons (2013). In 2011 The Continuum Companion to Existentialism appeared (Joseph, Reynolds, and Woodward 2011), followed by The Cambridge Companion to Existentialism (Crowell 2012a). Articles in both volumes are committed to showing the systematic relevance of existential concepts and approaches for contemporary work in philosophy and other fields. As Kevin Aho remarks, in areas as diverse as cognitive science, psychiatry, health care, and environmental philosophy, “the legacy of existentialism is alive and well” (2014: 140). If existentialism’s very notoriety as a cultural movement may have impeded its serious philosophical reception, it may be that what we have most to learn from existentialism still lies before us.
The bibliography is divided into two sections; taken together, they provide a representative sample of existentialist writing. The first includes books that are cited or mentioned in the body of the article. The second contains supplementary reading, including selected works by some of the figures mentioned in the first paragraph of the article, certain classical readings in existentialism, and more recent studies of relevance to the issues discussed. The bibliography is, somewhat arbitrarily, limited to works in English, and no attempt at comprehensiveness has been made. For detailed bibliographies of the major existentialists, including critical studies, the reader is referred to the entries devoted to the individual philosophers.
- Aho, K., 2014. Existentialism: An Introduction, Cambridge: Polity Press.
- –––, 2019. Contexts of Suffering: A Heideggerian Approach to Psychopathology, London: Rowman & Littlefield.
- Apel, K.-O., 1973. “The Apriori of the Communication Community and the Foundation of Ethics,” in Towards a Transformation of Philosophy, Glyn Adey and David Frisby (trans.), London: Routledge.
- Arendt, H., 1978. “Heidegger at Eighty,” in Heidegger and Modern Philosophy, Michael Murray (ed.), New Haven: Yale University Press.
- Arp, K., 2001. The Bonds of Freedom: Simone de Beauvoir’s Existentialist Ethics, Peru, IL: Open Court.
- Bakewell, S., 2016. At the Existentialist Café: Freedom, Being, and Apricot Cocktails, New York: Other Press.
- Baring, E., 2014, The Young Derrida and French Philosophy, 1945–1968, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
- Beauvoir, S., 1949 [1989a]. The Second Sex, H. M. Parshley (trans.), New York: Vintage Books, 1989.
- –––, 1955 [1989b]. “Merleau-Ponty and Pseudo-Sartreanism,” International Studies in Philosophy, 21(3): 3–48.
- Bergoffen, D., 1997. The Philosophy of Simone de Beauvoir, Albany: SUNY Press.
- Bernasconi, R. (ed.), 2003. Race and Racism in Continental Philosophy, Bloomington: Indiana University Press.
- Butler, J., 1990. Gender Trouble: Feminism and the Subversion of Identity, New York: Routledge.
- Carr, D., 1986. Time, Narrative, and History, Bloomington: Indiana University Press.
- Cooper, D., 1999. Existentialism, Oxford: Blackwell.
- Crowell, S., 2001. Husserl, Heidegger, and the Space of Meaning: Paths Toward Transcendental Phenomenology, Evanston: Northwestern University Press.
- –––, 2004. “Authentic Historicality,” in Space, Time, and Culture, David Carr and Cheung Chan-Fai (eds.), Dordrecht: Kluwer.
- –––, 2012a. The Cambridge Companion to Existentialism, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
- –––, 2012b. “Existentialism and its Legacy,” in The Cambridge Companion to Existentialism, Steven Crowell (ed.), Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
- –––, 2012c. “Sartre’s Existentialism and the Nature of Consciousness,” in The Cambridge Companion to Existentialism, Steven Crowell (ed.), Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
- Deutscher, P., 2008. The Philosophy of Simone de Beauvoir, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
- Dreyfus, H., 1979. What Computers Can’t Do: The Limits of Artificial Intelligence, New York: Harper Colophon.
- Dreyfus, H., and J. Haugeland, 1978. “Husserl and Heidegger: Philosophy’s Last Stand,” in Heidegger and Modern Philosophy, Michael Murray (ed.), New Haven: Yale University Press.
- Fackenheim, E., 1961. Metaphysics and Historicity, Milwaukee: Marquette University Press.
- Fell, J., 1979. Heidegger and Sartre: An Essay on Being and Place, New York: Columbia University Press.
- Gabriel, M., 2018. Neo-Existentialism, New York: Polity Press.
- Gordon, L., 1995. Bad Faith and Antiblack Racism, Atlantic Highlands: Humanities Press.
- Gelven, M., 1997. The Risk of Being: What it Means to Be Good and Bad, University Park: Penn State Press.
- –––, 1990. Truth and Existence: A Philosophical Inquiry, University Park: Penn State Press.
- Guignon, C., 1993. “Authenticity, Moral Values, and Psychotherapy,” in The Cambridge Companion to Heidegger, Charles Guignon (ed.), Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
- Hannay, A., 1982. Kierkegaard, London: Routledge.
- –––, 2012. “Kierkegaard’s Single Individual and the Point of Indirect Communication,” in The Cambridge Companion to Existentialism, Steven Crowell (ed.), Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
- Hatab, L., 2018. “Ecce Homo/Ecce Cogitatio: On Heidegger’s Politics and His Philosophy,” in After Heidegger, Gregory Fried and Richard Polt (eds.), New York: Rowman & Littlefield.
- Haugeland, J., 1998. Having Thought: Essays in the Metaphysics of Mind, Cambridge MA: Harvard University Press.
- Heidegger, M., 1927 . Being and Time, John Macquarrie and Edward Robinson (trans.), New York: Harper and Row.
- –––, 1925 . History of the Concept of Time: Prolegomena, Theodore Kisiel (trans.), Bloomington: Indiana University Press.
- –––, 1949 . “Letter on Humanism,” in Pathmarks, William McNeill (ed.), Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 1998.
- –––, 1966 . “‘Only a God Can Save Us’: The Spiegel Interview (1966),” in Heidegger: The Man and the Thinker, Thomas Sheehan (ed.), Chicago: Precedent Publishing, 1981.
- Heinämaa, S., 2003. Toward a Phenomenology of Sexual Difference, Lanham: Rowman & Littlefield.
- Jaspers, K., 1935 . Reason and Existenz, New York: Noonday Press, 1968.
- Joseph, F., Reynolds, J., and A. Woodward (eds.), 2011. The Continuum Companion to Existentialism, London: Continuum Publishing House.
- Judaken, J., and R. Bernasconi (eds.), 2012. Situating Existentialism: Key Texts in Context, New York: Columbia University Press.
- Kaufmann, W., 1968. Existentialism from Dostoevsky to Sartre, Cleveland: Meridian Books.
- Khawaja, N., 2016. The Religion of Existence: Asceticism in Philosophy from Kierkegaard to Sartre, Chicago: University of Chicago Press.
- Kierkegaard, S., 1846 . Concluding Unscientific Postscript, David F. Swenson and Walter Lowrie (trans.), Princeton: Princeton University Press, 1971.
- –––, 1843 . Fear and Trembling, Howard V. Hong and Edna H. Hong (trans.), Princeton: Princeton University Press, 1983.
- Kruks, S., 1990. Situation and Human Existence: Freedom, Subjectivity, and Society, London: Unwin Hyman.
- –––, 2012. Simone de Beauvoir and the Politics of Ambiguity, Oxford: Oxford University Press.
- Korsgaard, C., 1996. The Sources of Normativity, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
- MacIntyre, A., 1967. “Existentialism,” in The Encyclopedia of Philosophy (Volume III), Paul Edwards (ed.), New York: Macmillan Publishing Company.
- Malpas, J., 2012. “Existentialism as Literature,” in The Cambridge Companion to Existentialism, Steven Crowell (ed.), Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
- Marcel, G., 1946 . The Philosophy of Existentialism, New York: Citadel Press, 1968.
- McMullin, I., 2019. Existential Flourishing: A Phenomenology of the Virtues, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
- Merleau-Ponty, M., 1945 . Phenomenology of Perception, Colin Smith (trans.), New York: Routledge and Kegan Paul, 1962.
- Moran, R., 2001. Authority and Estrangement: An Essay on Self Knowledge, Princeton: Princeton University Press.
- Natanson, M., 1968. Literature, Philosophy, and the Social Sciences, The Hague: Martinus Nijhoff.
- Nehamas, A., 1998. The Art of Living: Socratic Reflections from Plato to Foucault, Berkeley: University of California Press.
- Nietzsche, F., 1887 . On the Genealogy of Morals, Walter Kaufmann (trans.), New York: Vintage Books, 1969.
- –––, 1882 . The Gay Science, Walter Kaufmann (trans.), New York: Vintage Books, 1974.
- –––, 1885 . Thus Spoke Zarathustra, in The Portable Nietzsche, Walter Kaufmann (trans.), New York: Viking Press, 1975.
- Ratcliffe, M., 2008. Feelings of Being, Oxford: Oxford University Press.
- Reynolds, J., 2004. Merleau-Ponty and Derrida: Intertwining, Embodiment, and Alterity, Athens: Ohio University Press.
- –––, 2006. Understanding Existentialism, Stocksfield: Acumen.
- Ricoeur, P., 1992. Oneself as Another, Kathleen Blamey (trans.), Chicago: University of Chicago Press.
- –––, 1970. Freud and Philosophy: An Essay on Interpretation, New Haven: Yale University Press.
- Sartre, J.-P., 1943 . Being and Nothingness, Hazel Barnes (trans.), New York: Washington Square Press, 1992.
- –––, 1947 . Baudelaire, Martin Turnell (trans.), New York: New Directions, 1967.
- –––, 1960 . Critique of Dialectical Reason I: Theory of Practical Ensembles, Alan Sheridan-Smith (trans.), London: Verso, 1976.
- –––, 1960 . Search for a Method, Hazel Barnes (trans.), New York: Vintage Books, 1968.
- –––, 1946 . Existentialism is a Humanism, Carol Macomber (trans.), New Haven: Yale University Press, 2007.
- –––, 1938 . Nausea, Lloyd Alexander (trans.), New York: New Directions, 1959.
- –––, 1944 . No Exit, and Three Other Plays, New York: Vintage Books, 1955.
- –––, 1948 . What is Literature? Cambridge MA: Harvard University Press, 1988.
- Schacht, R., 2012. “Nietzsche: After the Death of God,” in The Cambridge Companion to Existentialism, Steven Crowell (ed.), Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
- Schrift, A., 1995. Nietzsche’s French Legacy: A Genealogy of Poststructuralism, New York: Routledge.
- Simons, M., 2013. Beauvoir and the Second Sex: Feminism, Race, and the Origins of Existentialism, Lanham: Rowman and Littlefield.
- Spiegelberg, H., 1984. The Phenomenological Movement, 3rd edition, The Hague: Martinus Nijhoff.
- Taylor, C., 1985. “Self-Interpreting Animals,” in Philosophical Papers I: Human Agency and Language, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
- –––, 1989. Sources of the Self: The Making of the Modern Identity, Cambridge, MA: Harvard University Press.
- Warnock, M., 1967. Existentialist Ethics, London: Macmillan and Co, Ltd.
- Webber, J., 2018. Rethinking Existentialism, Oxford: Oxford University Press.
- Westphal, M., 2012. “Existentialism and Religion,” in The Cambridge Companion to Existentialism, Steven Crowell (ed.), Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
- Zaner, R., and D. Ihde (eds.), 1973. Phenomenology and Existentialism, New York: Capricorn Books
- Arendt, H., 1958 . The Human Condition, Chicago: University of Chicago Press, 1998.
- Aron, R., 1969. Marxism and the Existentialists, New York: Harper and Row.
- Barnes, H., 1967. An Existentialist Ethics, New York: Knopf.
- Barrett, W., 1958 . Irrational Man: A Study in Existential Philosophy, Garden City: Doubleday, 1962.
- Buber, M., 1947 . Between Man and Man, Ronald Gregor Smith (trans.), New York: Macmillan, 1978.
- –––, 1923 . I and Thou, Walter Kaufmann (trans.) New York: Scribner, 1970.
- Bultmann, R., 1966 . Faith and Understanding, Louise Pettibone Smith (trans.), Philadelphia: Fortress Press, 1987.
- –––, 1957. History and Eschatology, Edinburgh: Edinburgh University Press.
- Busch, T., 1999. Circulating Being: From Embodiment to Incorporation (Essays on Late Existentialism), New York: Fordham University Press.
- Camus, A., 1942a . The Myth of Sisyphus and Other Essays, Justin O’Brien (trans.), New York: Knopf, 1945.
- –––, 1942b . The Stranger, Matthew Ward (trans.), New York: Knopf, 1988.
- Collins, J., 1952. The Existentialists: A Critical Study, Chicago: Henry Regnery Company.
- Cotkin, G., 2003. Existential America, Baltimore: Johns Hopkins Press.
- Dostoevsky, F., 1976. The Brothers Karamazov: The Constance Garnett translation revised by Ralph E. Matlaw, New York: Norton.
- Earnshaw, S., 2006. Existentialism: A Guide for the Perplexed, London: Continuum.
- Flynn, T., 2006. Existentialism: A Very Short Introduction, Oxford: Oxford University Press.
- –––, 1997. Sartre, Foucault, and Historical Reason (Volume 1), Chicago: University of Chicago Press.
- Gordon, H., 1999. Dictionary of Existentialism, New York: Greenwood Press.
- Gordon, L., 1997. Existence in Black: An Anthology of Black Existential Philosophy, New York: Routledge.
- –––, 2000. Existentia Africana: Understanding Africana Existential Thought, London: Routledge.
- Gordon, P., 2016. Adorno and Existence, Cambridge: Harvard University Press.
- Grene, M., 1948. Dreadful Freedom: A Critique of Existentialism, Chicago: University of Chicago Press.
- Guignon, C., 2003. The Existentialists: Critical Essays on Kierkegaard, Nietzsche, Heidegger, and Sartre, New York: Rowman and Littlefield.
- Guignon, C., and D. Pereboom (2001), “Introduction: The Legacy of Existentialism,” in Existentialism: Basic Writings, Charles Guignon and Derek Perebomm (eds.), Indianapolis: Hackett.
- Jaspers, K., 1968. Reason and Existenz, William Earle (trans.), New York: Noonday Press.
- Judt, T., 1992. Past Imperfect: French Intellectuals 1944–1956, Berkeley: University of California Press.
- Kant, I., 1793 . Religion Within the Limits of Reason Alone, Theodore M. Greene and Hoyt H. Hudson (trans.), New York: Harper & Row, 1960.
- Marcel, G., 1949. Being and Having, Katherine Farrer (trans.), London: Westminster.
- McBride, W. (ed.), 1997. The Development and Meaning of Twentieth Century Existentialism, New York: Garland. Publishers
- Merleau-Ponty, M., 1955 . Adventures of the Dialectic, Joseph Bien (trans.), Evanston: Northwestern University Press, 1973.
- –––, 1962. The Phenomenology of Perception, Colin Smith (trans.), New York: Routledge and Kegan Paul.
- Natanson, M., 1986. Anonymity: A Study in the Philosophy of Alfred Schutz, Bloomington: Indiana University Press.
- Olafson, F., 1967. Principles and Persons: An Ethical Interpretation of Existentialism, Baltimore: The Johns Hopkins Press.
- Ortega y Gasset, J., 1929 . Revolt of the Masses, Anthony Kerrigan (trans.), Notre Dame: University of Notre Dame Press, 1985.
- Poster, M., 1975. Existential Marxism in Postwar France: From Sartre to Althusser, Princeton: Princeton University Press.
- Shestov, L., 1969. Kierkegaard and the Existential Philosophy, Elinor Hewitt (trans.), Athens: Ohio University Press.
- Solomon, R. (ed.), 1974. Existentialism, New York: Random House.
- Stewart, J. (ed.), 1998. The Debate Between Sartre and Merleau-Ponty, Evanston: Northwestern University Press.
- Tillich, P., 1952 . The Courage to Be, New Haven: Yale University Press, 2000.
- Unamuno, M., 1912 . The Tragic Sense of Life, J.E. Crawford Flitch (trans.), New York: Dover, 1954.
- Wahl, J., 1949. A Short History of Existentialism, Forrest Williams and Stanley Maron (trans.), New York: Philosophical Library.
- Wild, J., 1955 . The Challenge of Existentialism, Bloomington: Indiana University Press, 1963.
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