The Donation and Sale of Human Eggs and Sperm
The donation and transfer of human gametes (eggs and sperm) for reproductive purposes raises many important and difficult questions. Some of these relate directly to policy and practice; others are more conceptual. Gamete donation occupies an interesting position within bioethics, having something in common both with other forms of donation (blood and organs, for example) and with reproductive technologies not involving donation (ranging from IVF through to more controversial areas like cloning, embryo selection, and genetic modification). It also shares some features with adoption and surrogacy, practices which also (arguably at least) involve the transfer or delegation of parental duties and rights. (See entries on cloning, eugenics, feminist perspectives on reproduction and the family, the donation of human organs, and parenthood and procreation.)
Conceptually, gamete donation provides a valuable ‘lens’ through which to re-examine questions such as:
- What grounds parental rights and responsibilities?
- What rights and obligations do parents have regarding their children (actual or future) and to what extent can these be transferred or delegated?
It also raises questions in practical ethics and policy, such as:
- Should there be donor offspring limits (to prevent the same sperm donor having hundreds of biological children)? And, if so, what is the basis for these?
- Do donor-conceived children have a right to know about their origins? Should donor anonymity be permitted?
- What ‘matching’ and selection decisions should the prospective recipients be allowed to make? What information about donors should they be given?
- Is it acceptable to ‘buy and sell’ gametes? And is that any different morally from arrangements in which women are offered heavily discounted fertility treatment services in return for some of their eggs?
Such questions are the subject of this entry.
Before proceeding, however, two matters of definition and scope should be noted.
First, this entry focuses on the donation of human gametes for reproductive purposes, as opposed to for research. The rationale for this is that most of the interesting ethical and philosophical issues here concern, in one way or another, the moral and social relations between the donors, parents (recipients), and children created, and these do not generally arise in the research context. The main exception to this is section 4 (Payment) where similar questions of consent, exploitation, and harm have been raised in both research and treatment contexts (Baylis & McLeod 2007).
Second, there is the question of what counts as (reproductive) gamete donation. At least for the purposes of this entry, we intend the term ‘gamete donation’ to apply to those situations in which –
- A (the donor) voluntarily provides B (the recipient or recipients) with gametes (paid or otherwise); and
- A expects that and/or intends that B will use those gametes to create C (a child or some children); and
- Both A and B expect that and/or intend that A will not become a social or legal parent of C.
- 1. The Rights and Duties of Gamete Donors
- 2. Donor Anonymity
- 3. Donor Matching and Selection
- 4. Payment
- Academic Tools
- Other Internet Resources
- Related Entries
1. The Rights and Duties of Gamete Donors
Since the rights and responsibilities that attach to parenthood are generally thought to be very weighty, determining whether or not gamete donors are parents is a question that has attracted much attention. While there is considerable overlap here with the literature on the ultimate basis of parenthood more generally (see entry on parenthood and procreation) questions about parenthood in the context of gamete donation have garnered much specific attention. One important element that distinguishes the gamete donation literature examining parenthood from more general discussions of parental rights and responsibilities is the debate over the transferability of parental responsibilities. If transferring parental responsibility is easily possible, then determining whether gamete donors are included amongst their offspring’s initial parents might not be of great pragmatic importance. In addition to the debate about parental responsibilities, some others suggest that gamete donors have certain non-parental responsibilities towards their offspring.
1.1 Arguments in Favour of Gamete Donor Parenthood
A common starting point for the claim that gamete donors acquire parental responsibilities is the intuition that individuals who reproduce by accident, due to faulty contraception for example, possess parental responsibilities for their genetic children (Weinberg 2008; Nelson 1999; Fuscaldo 2006; Blustein 1997). The strength of this intuition is used as motivation for adopting a view that ascribes parental responsibilities on the basis of causal involvement in the creation of a child (causal views) rather than a view that ascribes parental responsibilities only to those who voluntarily assent to them (voluntarist views). Many authors who argue that gamete donors are parents proceed by offering a theoretical justification for this intuition, then apply this justification to gamete provision.
For instance, Nelson argues that our common-sense understanding of moral responsibility is what best explains our intuitions about parenthood in unintentional pregnancy. On this common-sense view, individuals are morally responsible for the consequences of their free actions when (1) their actions are sufficient to bring about those consequences, and (2) their actions are causally proximate to the consequence in question. Nelson further argues that gamete donors’ causal involvement in creating children does not significantly depart from that of unintentional parents (or at least not in morally relevant respects) and therefore that donors are equally parents (Nelson 1999, 2014). Fuscaldo similarly argues that parental responsibility in cases of accidental pregnancy is best explained by appeal to our standard account of moral responsibility, but argues that the standard account holds individuals morally responsible for the foreseeable consequences of their free actions. Since bringing children into existence is a foreseeable consequence of donating gametes, gamete donors have a moral responsibility to care for the children they help create (Fuscaldo 2006).
Another route is to argue that reproduction is an unusual kind of case, and that special rules apply when determining what moral responsibilities arise from involvement in it. An example is what Benatar calls ‘reproductive autonomy’. Benatar argues that individuals’ reproductive autonomy both entitles them to make reproductive decisions, and requires them to take responsibility for the consequences of those decisions. He argues that this is a special feature of our ability to reproduce that is not reducible to genetics or causality, and results in a presumptive duty to parent the children created from our gametes. This, he argues, best explains why parental responsibility arises in accidental pregnancy cases. Though in some circumstances the presumptive duty to parent one’s genetic children may be overridden, this is not the case for most instances of gamete provision (Benatar 1999).
One worry about Benatar’s argument is that its approach relies too heavily on stipulating that unique moral features attach to reproduction, and so risks begging the question. However, Rivka Weinberg offers an argument for a similar conclusion, but on more general grounds. Weinberg argues that when individuals exercise control over materials that pose grave risks to others (what she calls ‘hazardous materials’) they are liable for the consequences that arise, regardless of the precautions they take. As an example, she argues that an owner of a pet lion is liable for damage done by the lion, regardless of the precautions the owner takes to keep the lion contained. Calling this the “Hazmat Theory”, Weinberg argues that it applies to gametes because their use can have morally weighty consequences for third parties—namely the children that may result from the union of gametes. Consequently, Weinberg argues that gamete providers are obliged to care for the children that result from the voluntary use of their gametes (Weinberg 2008).
Importantly, none of the preceding arguments in favour of including gamete donors amongst a child’s parents rely on genetic relatedness. It is not the genetic similarity between gamete donors and their biological offspring that is doing the work, but rather considerations about the kind of thing gametes are (things that can create people) and the activity that gamete donors engage in with them.
Velleman (2005, 2008), however, has argued that being parented by close genetic relations is of great importance to the wellbeing of children, and that for this reason we ought to be sceptical of the ease with which society permits the separation of social from biological parenthood.
1.2 Arguments Against Gamete Donor Parenthood
Bayne argues that gamete donors are not parents because both causal and genetic accounts of parental responsibility suffer from a problem of regress, and thus fail as plausible grounds for parenthood (Bayne 2003). For instance, if a person is the parent of the individuals produced via their gametes, as they are according to Benatar, then it is unclear why parenthood should stop at the gamete donor and not the donor’s parents, or great grandparents etc. This because the donor is the product of the gametes of these previous generations. Similarly, on a causal account like the one offered by Nelson, if a child was caused to exist by the actions of a sperm donor, then why not think that the person whose actions are responsible for the existence of the sperm donor is similarly a parent of the child.
It is however unclear whether Bayne’s criticism in fact applies to Nelson and Benatar’s views. Nelson does appeal to causal proximity, but explicitly rejects the view that merely being part of the causal chain resulting in the creation of a child is sufficient for parenthood (Nelson 1991, 53). Benatar’s view does not rest on the genetic similarity between gamete donors and their children, but rather the autonomy individuals exercise over reproductive materials. While Bayne highlights a problem that causal accounts must resolve—namely where to draw the line in the causal chain—he does not show that Nelson and Benatar’s view succumbs to this problem.
A better route for challenging the view that gamete donors acquire parental responsibilities is to question whether responsibilities of this kind arise from causal involvement in procreation. For instance, Brake (2005, 2010) argues that while certain obligations towards children might arise as a result of causal involvement in procreation, it is a mistake to think that this includes the particularly intimate and weighty obligations subsumed in parenthood. More will be said about this argument in section 1.4.
1.3 The Transferability of Parental Responsibilities
Bayne (2003), Fuscaldo (2006), and Benatar (1999) all argue that even if gamete donors have parental responsibilities for their offspring initially, this does not mean that these cannot be transferred to others. In fact, there are circumstances where such transfers occur and we do not think they are problematic at all—adoption being one example. Fuscaldo (2006) argues that it is commonplace for parents to transfer some of their responsibilities to others (like the responsibility to educate their children to teachers, for example) and so we should not think it strange for individuals who are initially parents to transfer all their responsibilities to willing and competent others (see also O’Neill 1979). Though Benatar (1999) holds that gamete donors often fail to take sufficient care when transferring their responsibilities to others, under the right conditions, transferring parental responsibilities is both permissible and possible.
By contrast, some authors argue that such a transfer of responsibility is not possible, or at least not ethically permissible, at all (Velleman 2008; Weinberg 2008; Nelson 1991; Brandt forthcoming). For instance, Velleman (2008) argues that while adoption is acceptable when there is no other means to provide a child with an adequate life, this should not be confused with the intentional creation of children whose social link to their genetic parents will be severed. Because Velleman believes that preserving the social connection between children and genetic parents is of great importance for the wellbeing of children, he argues that, unless there is pressing reason to do otherwise, children ought to be parented by their genetic progenitors.
Weinberg (2008) argues that parental responsibilities cannot be transferred in full because certain kinds of intimate responsibilities can only be fulfilled by particular individuals: individuals in the right intimate relationship. For instance, a parent cannot transfer the obligation to support her child by attending a music or dance recital to a stranger. Since Weinberg thinks that gamete donors have a responsibility to love their children and that, because responsibility to love a particular person is paradigmatic of the kind that cannot be transferred, at least some donor responsibilities are not transferable.
Taking a slightly different approach, Brandt argues that much of the debate regarding the transferability of parental responsibilities failed to distinguish delegation from transfer. He argues that the important difference between the two is that in the former, delegators remain responsible for ensuring that the responsibilities get fulfilled, and thus are not fully alienated from them. He suggests that, when re-examined with this distinction in mind, the main examples offered in favour of the transfer of parental responsibilities in fact only support the permissibility of their delegation (Brandt forthcoming). For instance, parents have a duty to ensure that their children are in fact receiving proper education from their teachers, and thus Fuscaldo’s example provides a case for the delegation but not transfer of parental responsibilities.
1.4 Non-Parental Responsibilities
Many authors argue that responsibilities arise for gamete donors that do not rest on their status as parents. Bayne (2003) suggests that, though gamete donors are not parents, they may have the responsibility to prevent certain kinds of lives from coming about. For instance, they may be obliged to refrain from creating children with severe congenital diseases that would result in a ‘life not worth living’. Many authors (Bayne 2003; Archard 2010; Porter 2014; Fuscaldo 2006; O’Neill 1979) also think that gamete donors must take steps to ensure that their offspring will be parented in at least a minimally acceptable manner.
While the responsibilities mentioned above can be fulfilled prior to providing gametes, some authors think that certain non-parental responsibilities continue to exist after a child has been created, even if appropriate precautionary steps (e.g. choosing intending parents carefully, screening gametes for congenital diseases, etc.) were taken. For instance, Brake (2010) argues that gamete donors might have an ongoing duty to ensure that their biological offspring receive at least a minimum level of care (she calls these ‘procreative costs’) but that this should not be confused with parental responsibilities, which are more intimate and more morally weighty in nature. However, Prusak (2011) argues that the gap between Brake’s ‘procreative costs’ and parental responsibility is not as pronounced as it initially appears. Like Brake, Porter (2012, 2014) similarly argues that gamete donors must continue to take steps to ensure that their offspring have a decent life, though they are not necessarily obligated to parent their offspring themselves.
Another kind of non-parental obligation that gamete donors might have is to remain open to the possibility of forming relationships with their biological offspring, though this openness does not entail an obligation to in fact form such relationships (Little 1999).
1.5 Offspring Limits
In addition to obligations that focus on the health of potential offspring and the competence of intending parents, another question is whether there ought to be limits on the number of offspring that can be created from a single gamete provider. This question is most significant in sperm provision because of the relative ease of creating large numbers of children from the gametes provided by a single individual. Three major justifications have been offered for offspring limits: the risk of accidental consanguineous relationships, the likelihood of convoluted social relationships with kin, and general social discomfort with large offspring numbers (Wright 2016). While the last might not be a plausible justification on its own, it is worth mentioning because in practice such concerns have had an influential role in the imposition of offspring limits (Deech 1998; Warnock Report 1984).
Limiting offspring numbers in order to reduce the likelihood of accidental consanguineous relationships between offspring of the same donor was initially proposed by individuals concerned about possible health risks to subsequent generations (Curie-Cohen 1980). Recent work has been undertaken in an attempt to quantify these risks and the increased risk of congenital disease that such relationships pose (De Boer et al. 1995; Wang et al. 2007). While the increased risk of unintentional consanguinity is dependent on the size of the population served by a sperm bank, the risk is lower than might be initially thought. For instance, models developed by the Dutch suggest that an offspring limit of up to 25 would not result in any significant increased risk, given their particular demographic makeup (De Boer et al. 1995). In addition to the increased risk of congenital disease, there is a risk of psychological harm for individuals that discover they have unwittingly entered into a consanguineous relationship, given the associated social taboos (Wright 2016). Furthermore, there may be legal complications if an accidental consanguineous marriage is discovered after the fact (Cahn 2009a). One way to mitigate these risks without imposing offspring limits would be to increase openness in gamete provision, including actively informing individuals about the identity of their genetic siblings. However, even in the absence of such measures there is little agreement about how the risks associated with consanguinity should be translated into offspring limits, especially given the broad freedom individuals are generally afforded in their reproductive decisions (Wright 2016; HFEA 2011).
The main worry in relation to social relationships with kin is that initiating and maintaining relationships with progenitors and/or genetic siblings is made much more challenging if there are large numbers to accommodate. The extent to which this justifies offspring limits will depend on the importance placed on such relationships and, as noted previously, there is much disagreement about this. Furthermore, some empirical research into kin relationships following gamete provision has found that having large numbers of genetic siblings is not necessarily an impediment to the formation of meaningful relationships (Freeman, Jadva, & Slutsky 2016).
2. Donor Anonymity
There is general agreement that prospective parents ought to be able to enter into arrangements with gamete donors that specify certain kinds of engagement between the donor and future child, such as the provision of detailed biographical information or even ongoing contact. However, gamete donation arrangements in which there is an expectation that donors remain anonymous are more contentious. While some intending parents and donors prefer anonymous donation, there has been much discussion about the ethical permissibility of such arrangements.
Advocates of children’s rights to access identifying information about their donors generally defend their view by pointing to the possible harms that might arise in the absence of such information, and/or the purported fundamental right that individuals have to information about their origins (Ravitsky 2010, 2012; Velleman 2005, 2008; McGee, Brakeman, & Gurmankin 2001; Blyth & Farrand 2004). Possible harms considered include psychological distress, damaged familial relationships, reduced self-knowledge, and incomplete or incorrect medical records. Those who favour permitting anonymous donation argue that it is a mistake to place a great deal of importance on genetic origins, and question both the severity of the harms caused by anonymous donation and whether the existence of such harms even constitute an argument against donor-anonymity (Melo-Martín 2014; Haslanger 2009).
The philosophical debate takes place within a background of changing legal norms governing donor anonymity (Clark 2011; Frith 2001; Bernstein 2010). While maintaining donor anonymity was once common practice (and is mandatory in certain jurisdictions, such as France) there has been a strong trend towards enshrining in law donor-conceived children’s rights to access identifying information about their donor, at least once they reach the age of majority (Clark 2011; Frith 2001; Bernstein 2010; Brunet & Kunstmann 2013).
2.1 Psychological Distress and Self-Knowledge
One reason for prohibiting anonymous gamete donation is the distress that advocates of disclosure claim many donor-conceived children suffer as a consequence of the absence of identifying information about their biological progenitors. This distress is sometimes referred to as ‘genealogical bewilderment’, a term originally coined in reference to the distress experienced by adoptees, and its symptoms are said to include difficulty developing a personal identity that feels genuine, anguish about not knowing the identity of one’s genetic relations, and an obsession with trying to find out information about one’s genetic relations (Sants 1964; Cahn 2009b). Advocates of the right to know point to both scientific studies and general social observations, such as the rise of services to help donor-conceived individuals find their biological relations, as evidence of the severity of this harm (McWhinnie 2001; Frith 2001; Ravitsky 2010).
A related argument is that donor-conceived individuals are denied an important good if they are not given access to detailed information about their biological relations. More than simply satisfying curiosity, some argue that knowledge about one’s biological relations (especially through contact) is important for self-knowledge (Velleman 2005, 2008). On this view, while a name and biographical details may not replace being reared by biological relations, they do at least provide donor-conceived individuals with some information, and make contact later in life possible.
However, both these arguments have been challenged on empirical and philosophical grounds. While some studies do indeed show that a subset of donor-conceived individuals suffer psychological distress from not knowing the identity of their progenitors, others show that such distress is not common, and generally not particularly severe (Melo-Martín 2014; Haslanger 2009). Studies also show that early disclosure helps children incorporate the fact that they were donor-conceived into their identity and sense of self, thus helping them avoid some of psychological harms associated with genealogical bewilderment (Golombok et. al. 2002). Advocates of the permissibility of donor anonymity thus argue that there is no clear evidence that donor anonymity is likely to result in severe harm to offspring.
Additionally, some argue that any psychological harm that does arise is likely socially constructed. They point to studies showing that individuals who are unaware that they were donor-conceived do no worse than their peers when it comes to psychological wellbeing (Melo-Martín 2014; Haslanger 2009). Consequently, they argue that any psychological harms experienced by donor-conceived individuals arise in virtue of the social importance placed on biological ties rather than any ‘necessary’ deficit arising from being reared by individuals who are not genetic relations. Similar arguments have also been raised in response to Velleman’s views regarding the value of contact with genetic relations for self-knowledge (Haslanger 2009).
If the psychological harms arising as a consequence of donor-anonymity are socially constructed, then prohibiting anonymous gamete donation may exacerbate these harms. Such a prohibition could further reify the importance of biological ties (sometimes referred to as ‘biologism’), which is what gives rise to the harms in the first place (Melo-Martín 2014; Leighton 2014; Haslanger 2009).
2.2 Medical Records
Another reason offered for prohibiting anonymous gamete donation is that it prevents donor-conceived individuals from making health decisions informed by family medical history. If individuals are not informed about being donor-conceived, they risk making medical decisions on the incorrect assumption that their social family’s medical background reflects their own. And even if such individuals are informed that they are donor-conceived, they still suffer from an absence of medical information that is generally available to others (Ravitsky 2012). While it is true that medical information could be provided at the time of donation in a manner that preserves the anonymity of the donor, some argue that, as our understanding of congenital disease changes, new information is likely to become relevant (Leighton 2014; McGee, Brakeman, & Gurmankin 2001). Additionally, certain relevant medical conditions might only become apparent long after the donation. While a system could be put in place for donors to update their medical information, some argue that such a system would likely be too cumbersome for donor-conceived individuals to receive the medical information they need in a timely fashion (McGee, Brakeman, & Gurmankin 2001).
However, those who defend the permissibility of donor anonymity argue that the value of medical history is overstated, and will become less important as we move towards personalized medicine (Melo-Martín 2014). In fact, in a report recommending against permitting donor anonymity, the UK’s Nuffield Council on Bioethics stated that medical interests alone were not sufficient grounds for prohibiting donor anonymity (Nuffield Council on Bioethics 2013).
2.3 Family Cohesion
Another argument against donor anonymity is that secrecy about origins has the potential to damage the relationships between donor-conceived children and their social parents, especially in cases where the social parent(s) know the identity of the gamete donor(s) Some argue that the strain of having to ‘keep the secret’ is a cause of stress for social parents, and that this stress has a negative impact on familial wellbeing (Landau 1998). A potentially more significant source of family tension is accidental disclosure, especially when donor-conceived children are older. In this latter case, several harms might arise, and may be greatly exacerbated if children were not aware that they were donor-conceived. Children might develop feelings of distrust towards their social parents, and may have difficulty incorporating facts about their genetic history into their personal identity (Turner & Coyle 2000).
While harms caused by both secrecy and accidental disclosure can be mitigated to some extent without making identifiable information available, by simply disclosing to children at a young age that they are donor-conceived for example, some argue that more openness is better for familial unity, and that providing children with an opportunity to find out the identity of their donors (even if that is delayed until they are older) is usually best (Nuffield Council on Bioethics 2009).
Those who favour permitting anonymous gamete donation argue that, at best, the evidence suggests a slight improvement in familial wellbeing when information about a donor is provided along with disclosure about the method of their conception. Families in which children do not have access to identifying information about their donors still report good home-life and have positive relationships with their parents (Melo-Martín 2014). Thus, while non-disclosure might not be optimal, it is probably not so harmful that it falls outside of the domain of parental discretion. Furthermore, if the harms are socially constructed, as some have argued is the case in genealogical bewilderment, then we may have additional reasons for concluding that the harms to family cohesion do not justify prohibiting anonymous donation, since doing so would only further contribute to biologism (Melo-Martín 2014).
2.4 Fundamental Rights
The arguments against donor anonymity considered thus far focus on harms that might arise as a result of the practice. Another kind of argument is that individuals have a fundamental right to knowledge about their origins. In the legal literature, some have argued that the UN’s Declaration on The Rights of The Child and the European Convention on Human Rights establishes individuals’ rights to information about the circumstances of their conception, including information about their progenitors (Blyth & Farrand 2004). Apart from appeals to such declarations of rights, some attempts have been made to motivate recognition of a fundamental right to know via appeal to other fundamental goods.
One strategy is to tie the right to know to the right to an identity. Here the argument is that individuals require genuine facts about their biological history in order to develop a proper personal identity (Ravitsky 2010). However, one response is that that while children have a right to an identity, they do not have a right to a particular kind of identity, such as one based primarily on historical biological ties (Allen 1996). Another route is to argue that children have a right to be respected, and that hiding facts about their origins is a form of deception that we ought not permit (Freeman 1996). However, deception about origins is only a severe form of disrespect if we think that biological ties are important in the first place, and thus this argument risks begging the question.
2.5 Policy Argument from Analogy to Adoption
Offspring’s ability to access adoption records have oscillated quite substantially over the past century and a half, even within the same jurisdiction (Samuels 2000). More recently, regulatory structures have shifted in favour of providing adoptees with a legal right to access identifying information about their progenitors (Besson 2007, Hildebrand 1999). In such jurisdictions, some have argued that, because gamete donation is sufficiently similar to adoption, regulatory consistency demands that anonymous gamete donation be prohibited as well (Pratten v. British Columbia (Attorney General) 2012 BCCA 480; Chisholm 2012; Cahn 2009c – see Other Internet Resources). While this parity argument only goes so far in the absence of philosophical justification for prohibiting anonymous adoption (mere consistency could conversely be achieved by permitting anonymous adoption) it does give pause to examine the relevant similarities between the two practices.
The core of the parity argument is that in both adoption and gamete donation, children are reared by individuals other than their genetic progenitors. If we think that access to information about genetic progenitors is important enough to be elevated to the status of a right in adoption, then we ought to extend the same right to donor-conceived individuals as well.
In response, Leighton has argued that there are important disanalogies between adoption and gamete donation such that there may be no inconsistency in prohibiting anonymity in one case but not the other (Leighton 2014). For instance, adoptees are generally relinquished by their initial parent(s), and are often not raised by either of their genetic parents. In the case of gamete donation there is no similar relinquishing of parenthood, and often one of the genetic parents is also a social parent. These differences may very well result in divergences in the experiences of adoptees and donor-conceived individuals. For instance, adoptees might feel abandoned by their initial parents, and be curious about why they were relinquished, something that is unlikely to be the case in gamete donation. Furthermore, Leighton argues that since adoption has a history of stigmatization in the West while gamete donation has no such history, there is good reason to think that the psychological impact of anonymous adoption on adoptees will be different from the psychological impact of anonymous gamete donation on donor-conceived individuals (Leighton 2014).
While simply demonstrating that there are relevant disanalogies between adoption and gamete donation does not show that anonymity is permissible in the latter case but not the former, it does show that it is not outright inconsistent to have different policies governing anonymity for each.
3. Donor Matching and Selection
Recipients of donated gametes often wish to have some say in what their donor is ‘like’. The characteristics made available to inform donor selection decisions differ greatly dependent on both the countries and clinics in which such choices are made. However, such information tends to include medical, morphological, and biographical information similar to that found on dating websites, such as hair colour, eye colour, ethnicity, educational attainment, job type, hobbies, and religion.
Few commentators suggest that recipient-parents should be barred completely from accessing information about prospective donors, but neither is it generally assumed that they should be afforded unfettered liberty to choose their donors’ characteristics. Thus, the debate in this area tends to focus on where the line between morally acceptable and unacceptable selection practices lies.
3.1 Motivations Underlying Donor Selection
Three main categories of motivation underlie donor selection decisions.
The first is selection against donors posing a threat to the physical wellbeing of pregnant women. This form of selection is ubiquitous such that the barring of donors with sexually transmissible diseases such as HIV, hepatitis B and syphilis is mandated by national and international guidelines on gamete donation (see, for example HFE Act 2008: s. T52 – see Other Internet Resources). This motivation for selection is widely seen as morally unproblematic and will, for this reason, be largely ignored here.
The second and third categories of motivation, termed here, selection for ‘matching’ and selection for ‘design’ are, unlike the first, based on parental and/or societal preferences or values. In practice, most donor selection decisions will fall into both categories, but a theoretical distinction is nonetheless made between the two in the philosophical literature.
Selection for ‘matching’ is performed with the aim of creating a child who bears a similarity to the recipient parents. Thus, gamete donors are selected (or deselected) by reference the extent to which their physical (and sometimes social and psychological) characteristics match those of recipient parents. As Braverman and Frith (2014) note, the aim of this practice is often:
to enable secrecy and concealment of gamete donation. This practice incorporates a popular knowledge of genetics and enables the child to ‘pass’ as a naturally conceived child. This is an attempt to avoid overt ‘difference’ between child and couple and when a good match is achieved the donor disappears from view. (Braverman & Frith 2014: 135)
There may however, be aims other than secrecy and concealment. These may have their basis in concerns regarding compatibility (wanting our children to be ‘like us’ and to ‘fit in’) (Ruddick 2000), premised on physical or psychological desire (we often choose our reproductive partners because they possess characteristics that please us), or even with the aim of avoiding offence - a member of a couple may be offended if his/her partner prefers a donor with characteristics markedly different from his/her own (Pennings 2000). Importantly, matching motivations are distinguished from other motivations for selection as they are limited only to desires to select for donors with characteristics possessed by one/both intended social parents and should be based only in a desire to attain resemblance between parent and child.
Selection motivated by design, however, is performed with the aim of creating a child with characteristics which may or may not be possessed by the recipient parents but which are, nonetheless, deemed by them (and/or society) to be desirable (and often advantageous). Such selection may thus be performed with several aims in mind. These include but are not limited to desires to increase the life prospects of one’s children by preventing the birth of children with disadvantageous or without advantageous characteristics, to satisfy preferences for a particular ‘kind of child’, or with the eugenic aim of improving the gene pool through the selection of donors deemed to possess ‘superior’ heritable traits.
Of these two categories, a desire for matching is generally thought to be less morally problematic than a desire for design, since desires for familial resemblance, secrecy (within limits), and to avoid offence are often considered relatively benign. This is not, however, to say that no critical work has been done on this topic as shall be seen in subsection 3.3 which looks to the question of whether race-based matching and selection practices are morally permissible.
Design-based motivations for selection, however, have been the subject of a great deal more debate. This discussion largely mirrors (or is subsumed by) many of the discussions had regarding the ethics of selective reproductive technologies, such as pre-implantation and pre-natal genetic diagnosis, and such topics as sex selection and human enhancement (see entries on pregnancy, birth & medicine, and eugenics). For, although in the context of gamete donor selection there are no embryos or fetuses involved, nor genetic manipulation performed, there has been much focus on questions of:
- Whether it might be obligatory for recipient parents and/or clinics to select against ‘disadvantageous’ genetic characteristics in their future offspring via donor selection.
- Whether selection for/against certain characteristics may be impermissible on grounds that it explicitly or implicitly expresses misinformed or ‘ugly’ and discriminatory attitudes towards existing persons with ‘deselected’ characteristics.
- Whether the desire to influence children’s genetic constitutions through gamete donor selection represents troubling parental attitudes which may be contrary to common conceptions of the good parent and parental virtues such as ‘unconditional love’ and ‘openness to the unbidden’
With this in mind, throughout the following subsections such debates will be explored in turn.
3.2 Selection against Disability and Disadvantage
The desire to have a child free from disability and disease is often considered the least contentious ground for gamete donor selection. Parents and prospective parents, after-all, tend to want the best for their children and diseases and disabilities can make the attainment of a ‘good life’ life harder. Given this, and the fact that donor selection, unlike other forms of selective reproduction, raises few thorny questions regarding women’s rights over their own bodies and the moral permissibility of abortion or the destruction of embryos, the dominant position among philosophers regarding gamete selection for the purpose of disability avoidance is one of permissiveness (see for example: Robertson 1994; Glover et al. 1989; Glover 2006; Strong 1997; Bennett 2001; Wilkinson 2010). Robertson (1994) sums up this view well when he states:
The desire not to have a child with serious defects is not itself immoral, and actions to avoid such a reproductive outcome should be respected as an important aspect of procreative liberty. The question then is what means to achieve that goal are acceptable… Preconception selection by voluntary selection of mates or gametes raises the fewest problems… Concern with the genetic fitness of a mate may not be romantic but it is rational if one is concerned about the health of spouse and offspring. Mate selection should thus be left to the individual. Similarly, the selection of a gamete donor should be left to the couple that needs this service. (Roberson 1994: 154)
Some go further, arguing that donor selection for the purpose of disability-avoidance is not merely permissible but, in certain circumstances, obligatory (see, for example: Savulescu 2001; Savulescu & Kahane 2009; Harris 1985, 2002; Buchanan et al 2000; Glover 1989; Glover 2006). Discussions regarding this matter have tended to focus less on gamete donor selection and more on the selection of embryos and fetuses through pre-implantation and pre-natal genetic diagnosis. However, as Holm and Bennett (2014) and Williams (2017) note, arguments suggesting a moral obligation to select against disability in these contexts apply to gamete donor selection too.
Indeed, that this is the case can be seen clearly in the negative media reaction and public outrage directed towards a deaf couple who, after deliberately conceiving a deaf child in the early 2000s via the use of a 5th generation deaf sperm donor, were vilified by the tabloid media and condemned by the US National Association of the Deaf. (For interesting and insightful commentaries on this case see Savulescu 2002; Spriggs 2002; Fahmy 2011.) It can also be seen in the fact that many countries require that clinics screen out potential donors for heritable diseases prior to their inclusion on the donor register. A notable example of this is the UK’s Human Fertilisation and Embryology Act which, since 2008, has included a clause prohibiting the selection of gamete donors and embryos
that are known to have a gene, chromosome, or mitochondrion abnormality involving a significant risk that a person with the abnormality will have or develop: (a) a serious physical or mental disability, (b) a serious illness, or (c) and other serious medical condition. (HFE Act 2008, s. 14(4)(9) – see Other Internet Resources)
Yet on what grounds might such an obligation be based? Some suggest that a moral basis for such an obligation may be found by focusing on the interests of and/or the rights of the children that will result from our procreative decisions (see Davis 2001 for a rights-focused approach). Arguments falling into this category thus focus on person-affecting reasons, picking out the harms or limits to opportunity associated with certain disabilities as providing good reason to select against donors with traits liable to result in such harms and limits to opportunity. Such an approach is intuitive. However, given the conclusions of the Non-Identity Problem (see entry on the non-identity problem), many question the logic of appeals to the interests of the child created in all but cases of the most severe disabilities. For, as it is generally held that a life with a disease or disability is better than no life at all, and selection decisions alter who it is that comes to exist rather than the prospects of determinate future persons, a focus on the interests of future children cannot ground such an obligation (Bennett 2009; Parfit 1984; Parker 2007; Robertson 1994).
Others suggest that although the objects of our procreative efforts may not be harmed by being born with a disability prospective parents may nevertheless have good moral reason to select against disability in their offspring on the basis of other considerations. These include appeals to the interests of others whose interests may be affected by our reproductive decisions such as existing children and other dependents (Roberts 2009) and taxpayers in countries with socialized medical and welfare systems (Heyd 1995; Fahmy 2011; Rakowski 2002; Williams 2017); appeals to the claim that to fail to take reasonable steps to prevent disability in one’s future children is contrary to common conceptions of the good parent (Steinbock & McClamrock 1994); and to the suggestion that that those who fail to avoid disability in their offspring act wrongly as they deliberately or negligently choose to create a state of affairs that is strictly worse (in terms of some particular value such as happiness/preference satisfaction) than the state of affairs that could have been created had they chosen differently (Harris 1985; Parfit 1984; Glover 1989; Glover 2006). (See entry on eugenics for a more detailed treatment and criticisms of different arguments in support of an obligation to select against disability.)
Such arguments have been criticized by many who suggest that parental obligations to their offspring cannot be so strong as to ground an obligation to select against disability (Williams 2017); that
complex concepts such as the good life, the best life, and human flourishing, are not reducible to simple elements or constituent parts which might be identified by the testing of embryos [and selection of sperm donors]; (Parker 2007: 281)
and that appealing to impersonal harms devalues those with disabilities by suggesting that their lives are worth less than those without disabilities (Asch 2003; Bennett 2009). Yet, whilst such authors tend to suggest that there cannot be an obligation to select against disability, they also suggest that prospective parents should be at liberty to do so. Among a number of authors associated with the disability rights movement however, a different claim is made. For, such authors suggest that not only can there be no moral obligation to select against disability, parental preferences to screen out disabled donors are morally problematic for two reasons.
The first regards the messages that such preferences send about and towards persons living with disabilities, ones which may be seen as discriminatory and offensive: “express[ing] a hurtful attitude about and a hurtful message to people who live with [disabilities]” (Parens & Asch 1999: S2).
The second is that the desire to select against disabling genetic traits is based on misinformation regarding both the severity and true nature of disability. In terms of severity, for example, it has been widely reported that persons with disabilities tend to report good quality of life despite the fact that most (non-disabled) observers suggest the opposite (for work on the disability paradox see Albrecht & Devieger 1999). Regarding the true nature of disability, it is claimed that contrary to the views of many, who hold that disability is inherently disadvantageous, many (and, for those who take an extreme approach, all) of the harms associated with disability are socially constructed. That is, they are often not the result of failures in functioning but society’s failing to account for everyone when designing physical, economic, and social institutions (Glackin 2010). Thus, it is suggested that as disability is often not a feature intrinsic to those who suffer it, to attempt to prevent disability by preventing the existence of persons with inabilities is very much akin to attempts to prevent sexism or racism by preventing the births of black people and women: an inappropriate response to a social problem (Asch 2003). Taken to extremes, however, social constructivism is often viewed as irredeemably flawed by the academic community and a great number of able bodied and disabled persons alike. Robert Kitcher expresses this well when he notes that if we take a wholly social constructivist view
attempts to decrease the incidence of Tay-Sachs will be no different from Northern Indian sex selection or from anticipated future efforts to cure lesbians. (Kitcher 1996: 215)
(See entries on parenthood and procreation & eugenics for more in depth discussion of the suggestion that they may be a moral obligation to select against disability in our offspring and the entry disability: definitions, models, experience for more information on models of disability.)
3.3 Characteristics Related to ‘Race’
Questions and concerns have also been raised regarding the appropriateness of selection on the basis of characteristics related to ‘race’, such as skin, eye, and hair colour. Had gamete donor selection been well known in the 1980s when discussion raged concerning whether trans-racial adoption practices constituted a step in the right direction towards the social ideal of colour-blindness, a form of racial and cultural genocide, or something in between the two, one might have expected to see similar discussions regarding donor selection. This however has not been the case and instead, the philosophical literature on race-based selection has tended to focus on the question of whether selection of race-based characteristics is appropriate at all.
For the most part this focus is due to contemporary debates regarding the question of whether the concept of race is philosophically and scientifically defensible. Thus, work suggesting the removal of racial identifiers on donor catalogues seems to owe a great deal to authors such as K. Anthony Appiah (1995, 1996) and Naomi Zack (1993, 2002) who both deny that race is a coherent concept and recommend discarding it entirely (see entry on race).
Fogg-Davis (2001), for example, suggests that both the practice of reproducing race through assisted reproduction and selecting donors on the basis of different race-linked characteristics are problematic as they raise two major linked ethical issues:
one is the harm that racial stereotyping causes to individuals, and the second is the public awareness that racial stereotyping is an accepted feature of this largely unregulated market.
She suggests that those who use racial classification to inform donor selection decisions are saying that
race is heritable and relevant to their vision of family structure… that a person’s gametes are transmitters of racial meaning that can and should be selectively transmitted to their child through the use of reproductive technologies. (Fogg-Davis 2001: 18)
Harris (1998) too questions the legitimacy of the desire to match donors to recipient parents on the basis of race-linked characteristics such as skin tone, and hair and eye colour. He notes:
Why do so many people firmly believe that children should be like their parents, particularly in terms of their general colour and racial characteristics? It is difficult not to view this desire, and attempts to implement it, as a form of ‘ethnic cleansing.’ It smacks very much of the pressure that so many societies and cultures have put upon their members not to ‘marry out’ or to put it more bluntly, not to mate with somebody of another tribe or race. (Harris 1998: 21)
Others however suggest that there is
no evidence to suggest that racial prejudice accounts for why sperm banks sort sperm donors according to race or why many prospective parents hope for a child of a particular race. (Fox 2009: 1860)
Such authors suggest instead that racial preferences in gamete donation are more likely to stem from a desire to replicate the family structure of the biological family, to avoid deficient access to racial culture and consciousness, to increase their children’s prospects in unjust social contexts, or premised on a desire “to make the donor invisible and to conform the new-founded family to the ideal of the natural family” (Pennings 2000: 508). With this in mind, Fox suggests that although race-based selection should not be condemned in all cases it is important to “soften the prominence of race in donor selection by taking measures to frustrate wholesale filtering of sperm donors on the basis of race” (Fox 2009: 1893).
Others still note that those who desire to select for race-linked characteristics for these ‘less objectionable’ reasons must still consider the wider consequences of doing so. Agar (2004), for example, when considering the question of selection for race and sexual orientation in the context of genetic engineering, suggests that whilst the aim of increasing the life prospects of one’s children in racist and homophobic societies by selecting for heterosexual and light skinned offspring is not objectionable, such practices should not be permitted. Not only would such selection collude with prejudice, constituting an inappropriate response to a social problem, but it would likely also undermine attempts to change racist and homophobic social attitudes and practices.
3.4 Parental Virtues, Expectations, and Openness to the Unbidden
Gamete donor selection may also be motivated by a desire to parent a ‘particular kind of child’ such as where a music lover seeks out a concert pianist in order to increase the likelihood that the future child will possess such talents, or where a couple seek out gamete donors with genius level IQ in order to increase the likelihood of rearing an academically gifted child (as with the couples who purchased sperm in the 1990s from the ‘repository of germinal choice’) (Plotz 2006) .
Such cases raise a different kind of concern about whether selection, when performed in order to satisfy these kinds of preferences, encourages and facilitates the development of ethically troubling attitudes on the part of prospective parents.
This concern has been expressed in various different ways. Some, for example, suggest that selection motivated by such desires is incompatible with parental virtues such as ‘acceptingness’ (McDougall 2007), ‘openness to the unbidden’ (Sandel 2007), and ‘unconditional love’ (Herrisone-Kelly 2007). Those who take this view hold onto the traditional notion of the child as a gift and correspondingly suggest that parents ought to care, not about the traits that their children possess, but about developing a loving relationship with and raising whatever child they receive. Others take a more Kantian line, suggesting that such these parents are wrongfully instrumentalising their children: treating them as a means of fulfilling parental hopes and dreams rather than as entities who, once born, exist for their own sake (Davis 1997).
Yet the suggestion that a selective mentality is incompatible with important parental virtues or problematically instrumentalises one’s future children has been the subject of some debate. Authors such as Ruddick (2000) and Green (2008), challenge the ‘maternalist assumption’ that parents
who want a child should accept and welcome any child they happen to receive, prepared to appreciate the child’s developing individuality, however different from their own. (Ruddick 2000: 102)
They hold instead that other conceptions of parenthood can, provided they are not taken to extremes, be perfectly adaptive, and crucially, do not require parents to refrain from all attempts to shape the characteristics of their prospective children. They suggest that parents should rightly be viewed as both guardians of the children’s future interests, and ‘gardeners’ who may shape and raise children in line with their own preferences and priorities.
Others question whether the virtues of the prospective parent are the same as those of an existing parent. For, although some hold that a desire to have a hand in the characteristics of one’s future children is part of a broader desire to parent and thus requires “committing oneself to acting and evaluating one’s actions and decisions in light of the project of parenthood” (Vehmas 2001: 439), others argue that a desire to select is not incompatible with such a commitment. Kamm argues, for example, that a distinction can be made between ‘caring to have’ a particular child and ‘caring about’ one’s future children once born and suggests that there is little reason to assume that the desire to seek out certain attributes in one’s children is incompatible with parental virtues or common conceptions of the good parent. She notes
one can know that one will care about someone just as much whether or not she has certain traits and yet care to have someone that has, rather than lacks such traits. (Kamm 2009: 113)
This is echoed by Wilkinson who, discussing a hypothetical example of two prospective parents who seek to ensure the birth of a blue eyed child and agree that they will put it up for adoption after birth should it not possess such characteristics, notes
it is not the desire to select that violates the principle of unconditional love [or other parental virtues], but rather the plan to reject the child if it does not live up to expectations… it is entirely possible to want to select characteristics while not having this problematic attitude of rejection. (Wilkinson 2010: 29)
Some suggest however that, although selection is not necessarily morally problematic, we should still be concerned that a selective mentality may be a precursor of conditional, as opposed to unconditional, love once the child is born, or to unrealistic expectations and feelings of entitlement. Thus, the suggestion here is that people who go to great lengths and incur great expense in procuring what are, for them, the ‘perfect’ gametes, may be more likely to reject or otherwise mistreat their children should they fail to develop the ‘right’ capacities and interests (see, for example: Kass 2003; Sandel 2007). Again, however, it is not at all clear that the link between a selective mentality in reproduction and overzealous and unforgiving parenting styles is a necessary one, as the majority of parents are not liable to be so naïve to “presume to know what they are getting simply because they had a hand in selecting some of their child’s genetic features” (Fahmy 2011: 7), or indeed that gamete donor selection is as likely as other more expensive and effective forms of selective reproduction (such as genetic engineering) to produce such problematic expectations and attitudes.
Should gamete providers be paid? If so, should such payments be limited to compensation (possibly including compensation for time and inconvenience)? Or is incentivising or rewarding providers also morally acceptable?
In favour of payment, the main reason cited is increased supply, thus enabling recipients to have children that they wouldn’t otherwise have had—or, where scarcity per se is not an issue, giving recipients more choice. In addition, supporters of payment cite justice (gamete providers deserve to be rewarded) and autonomy (providers and recipients should be allowed to contract with each other as they see fit). Finally, pragmatic arguments are sometimes offered, such as the cost of prohibition or the possibility of its leading to an unregulated ‘black’ or ‘grey’ market in gametes (Resnick 2001; Steinbock 2004; Wilkinson 2013)
4.1 Familiar Arguments from Other Contexts
Some of the arguments and issues concerning payment for gametes closely resemble ones arising in other areas such as organ sale, sex work, and commercial surrogacy (see entries on exploitation, feminist perspectives on reproduction and the family, feminist perspectives on sex markets, parenthood and procreation, and the sale of human organs). We deal with these briefly here before moving on to consider in greater detail some of the more distinctive issues raised by paying gamete providers. The focus here is on gametes for clinical use in human reproduction, rather than gametes for research purposes, although many of the same issues also arise in a research setting.
4.1.1. Harm and/or Risk to Donors
One of the most obvious issues is harm or risk to the providers (Resnick 2001; Steinbock 2004).
In the case of sperm, the physical risks of donating are negligible, but concerns have been raised about psychosocial risks, especially if one man is permitted to generate numerous offspring. What happens, for example, if a single sperm donor produces hundreds of children and a significant proportion of those contact him years later? That could have a significant impact on the man’s life (and on the welfare of the children, discussed below). One way of containing this risk would be to limit donor offspring numbers; another would be to allow donor anonymity, although that may be objectionable on other grounds (see our earlier discussions of donor anonymity and donor offspring limits).
Producing hundreds of children is unlikely to be a problem for egg donors but, unlike sperm donors, these women do face non-negligible physical risks: notably OHSS (Ovarian Hyper Stimulation Syndrome).
As with the organ sale debate, though, it is not clear why the existence of these risks constitutes an objection to payment, as opposed to an objection to the whole practice of gamete donation (paid or otherwise) since the risks don’t increase as a result of payment (Wilkinson 2013). In response to this, in the case of sperm donation, it could be argued that the scenario where one man produces hundreds of children is much more likely to happen if payment is allowed, as some men seek to become ‘professional sperm donors’. As has been noted however it should be possible to neutralise this risk by enforcing donor offspring limits.
4.1.2. Consent, Exploitation, and Inducements
Another set of issues is the negative effect that payments, or payments above a certain level, are supposed to have on the quality of consent—a concern that is closely linked to worries about exploitation. Financial incentives, it is argued, encourage people to do things that they would not otherwise do, encourage them to do things that are harmful, and make their actions, consents, and decisions less likely to be autonomous and voluntary (Resnick 2001; Steinbock 2004; Wilkinson 2013). These arguments are more often directed at paid egg donation than paid sperm donation, because the direct physical risks and the sums of money involved for eggs tend to be much greater. Thus, people have been concerned that vulnerable young egg donors might be lured into the egg market and then exploited by clinics, egg banks, or recipients. These concerns structurally parallel ones that people often have about commercial surrogacy and sex work.
Arguments of this kind are dealt with in much more detail in the entries on Exploitation, Feminist Perspectives on Sex Markets, Parenthood and Procreation, Informed Consent, and The Sale of Human Organs. For the present, we simply note that, while the possibility of defective consent and exploitation must be taken seriously in any system of paid gamete donation, there seems no reason in principle why paying for gametes must be exploitative, nor why it cannot be validly consented to. Provided that the payment-levels are fair, and that the provider’s situation, mental capacities, and access to information are all sufficiently favourable, it is hard to see why—in common with other financial transactions—gamete provision can’t be validly consensual and non-exploitative.
4.1.3. Commercialisation and Selection
Finally, we note here that there is a connection between remuneration arrangements and selection practices (discussed above). In particular, one objection to allowing payment—or at least to the unfettered commercialisation of gametes—is that it may encourage a market in which particular traits can, for those willing to pay a high price, be aggressively selected for. For example, in the USA, young attractive white female egg donors attending ‘Ivy League’ universities can command a higher fee for their eggs than other donors—and anyone who is willing to pay can have access to those eggs. So, anyone who regards selection practices like this as problematic may also regard the commercialisation of gametes as problematic inasmuch as it underpins and enables fine-grained selection by ‘gamete consumers’ to take place.
4.2 Payment and the Welfare of the Child
We turn now to some of the more ‘distinctive’ issues relating to paying gamete donors. The first of these is the welfare of the child created. While this issue is ‘distinctive’ inasmuch as it applies only in the reproductive sphere (and so not to, for example, organ sale) it does arise in other reproductive areas, notably commercial surrogacy (Harris 2000).
The main worry here is that when donor-conceived children find out that money is what primarily motivated the donor then, in some cases, this will have adverse psychological effects; in the most extreme, they may come to feel that they were ‘bought’ (HFEA 2011). What follows from this possibility, however, is unclear.
To start with, there are empirical questions about how many donor-conceived people will feel this way and about how severe their negative feelings (if any) are. Not all donor-conceived people have negative feelings about donor motives and financial reward; some may not care what their donors’ motives were. So, if this concern is going to ground an ethical argument against paying donors, a solid evidence base will be needed to underpin its empirical premises.
Similarly, there is a set of questions not so much about donors’ actual motives are, but about what they write on their donation papers, and about how and when information is conveyed to their offspring. One view is that, for the sake of the welfare of the child, it would be better for donors to ‘tell a story’ (even if not wholly accurate) that donor-conceived children will find more palatable than the bare truth that the donor simply needed money. Another is that if donor-conceived children are communicated with appropriately, honestly, and sensitively, and at an early stage then any problems associated with donor motives will be minimal (Nuffield Council on Bioethics 2013).
Still, let’s allow (at least for the sake of argument) that these problems are insurmountable: that—whatever we do—a significant number of donor-conceived children will be substantially harmed by the knowledge that their donors were paid. What follows from this?
First, we should note that this area is subject to the implications of the Non-Identity Problem (Parfit 1984). In particular, given that (let’s assume) many paid sperm donors would not have donated but for the money, it is plausible to supposed that children who suffer psychological harm when they find out about their donors would not have existed if there hadn’t been payments. Therefore, for standard reasons relating to the Non-identity Problem, they may not be harmed by the practice of payment—or at least not in the usual comparative harm-to-interests sense (worse off than they would otherwise have been). (See entry on the non-identity problem.) So, while there may still be a child welfare argument against payment, it must rely not on harm-avoidance but rather on impersonal welfare considerations.
Given this, a lot hinges on whether payment is required to ensure an adequate supply of donor gametes. If it is not (if, for example, the reasons for paying people are quite trivial ones, such as administrative convenience, or even allowing recipients more choice) then the fact that payment will adversely affect donor welfare does looks like a good (albeit prima facie) reason to prefer altruistic donation. Imagine that we have a choice between creating a population of donor-conceived children using paid donors or a different but equally large population using altruistic donors. If (as we’re allowing) the latter will have a higher quality of life then there is a strong ‘impersonal’ reason, other things being equal, to prefer the latter: altruistic donation. Things look rather different though if the choice is instead between a population of donor-conceived children using paid donors or a different and significantly smaller population, for then it would be necessary to ‘trade off’ a higher average quality of life against both (a) the fact that there are fewer lives overall and (b) any harm done to prospective parents who are denied the opportunity to raise a donor-conceived child. Any such moral calculation will be complex and this goes to show that, in cases where payment is required to secure an adequate supply of gametes, this is not obviously wrong (all things considered) even if there are detrimental effects on donor-conceived people’s quality of life (Wilkinson 2016).
4.3 Egg Sharing
Some countries (notably the United Kingdom) either prohibit or strictly limit payments to egg donors but allow an exception whereby ‘egg sharers’ (women who are themselves undergoing infertility treatment and wish to donate in return for reduced fees) can receive unlimited benefits-in-kind in the form of cut-price infertility treatment services. The UK, for example, limits payments to egg donors to £750 (approx. US$900) and yet egg sharers can have their own treatment costs reduced by many thousands of pounds (HFEA 2017: guidance note 13).
This raises the question of whether ethically egg sharing is preferable to egg selling and, if so, why—along with the closely related question of whether egg sharing should be treated more favourably in law and professional regulation (Blyth & Golding 2008).
The main reason offered in favour of egg sharing is that ‘sharers’ are exposed to less additional harm and/or risk than donors (paid or otherwise), since they are already undergoing most of the required interventions as part of ongoing treatment. It is supposed to follow from this that incentivising egg sharing (other things being equal) is less morally problematic than incentivising egg donation: either because of the putative wrongness of encouraging people to take ‘excessive’ risks, or because financial incentives may vitiate consent to those risks (Wilkinson 2013).
This does seem like a sound prima facie reason to prefer egg sharing although several caveats must be noted. First, some special types of risk may apply to egg sharers: for example, older women who don’t have many viable eggs left might reduce their chances of having a child by giving away ‘surplus’ eggs (Scott, Williams, Ehrich, & Farsides 2012). Second, and similarly, concerns about consent may apply just as forcefully to egg sharers as to egg sellers, especially if some of these are ‘desperate’ to have a child and egg sharing is their only way of paying for infertility treatment services (Blyth & Golding 2008). Thirdly, as already mentioned, this argument—if it worked—would show egg sharing to be superior not only to paid donation but also to altruistic donation, since the additional risks are the same whether paid or not (Wilkinson 2013).
A different kind of reason for treating egg sharing more favourably than egg selling is based on the idea that egg sharers’ motives will typically by morally preferable to those of egg sellers. In particular, it has been claimed that whereas egg sellers are typically motivated by the desire for money, egg sharers act partly out of a sense of solidarity with potential recipients—in particular because both the sharer and the recipient are in similar positions. Both need, or want, infertility treatment services in order to have a child (HFEA 2011; Prainsack & Buyx 2011).
However, whether this really justifies the differential treatment of benefits-in-kind (treatment services) and monetary reward is far from clear. One reason for doubt is that, as the HFEA notes:
What is known about donor motivation … is that it is multifaceted. People make decisions for a range of reasons, and competent adults are capable of assessing the relative benefits, burdens and likely impact of a range of options available to them. An incentive to donate does not necessarily mean people will do so purely because of that incentive. Indeed, the literature suggests that both donors and sharers have mixed motives for donating. (HFEA 2011: section 2, 4.4 [p. 8])
This suggests that, in relation to solidarity, there is no categorical difference between payment and benefits-in-kind. While some egg sharers may be motivated mainly by feelings of solidarity, others may be more interested simply in saving money. Conversely, while some paid donors would be ‘in it just for the money’, others (perhaps those whose close friends or relatives have fertility problems, or who have experienced health problems of their own) could be moved to donate because of feelings of solidarity (the fact that they are financially rewarded notwithstanding). As such, it is by no means obvious that all egg sharers are motivated by feelings of solidarity, or that all paid donors would fail to have this feeling. Indeed, it is by no means obvious even that most egg sharers are motivated by feelings of solidarity and there is empirical evidence suggesting that the number of sharers significantly decreases when state funded treatment is made widely available (Pennings 2009).
Finally, and more fundamentally, even if donations motivated by altruism or solidarity were morally preferable to more self-interested ones (donations motivated purely by the desire for money, for example) it would not necessarily follow that the latter are wrong or should be prohibited. For, it may just be that the former are supererogatory: that while paid donation is merely permissible, unpaid donation is an act of generosity or solidarity goes beyond what is morally permitted or required (Wilkinson & Garrard 1996).
- Agar, Nicholas, 2004, Liberal Eugenics: In Defence of Human Enhancement, Oxford: Blackwell.
- Albrecht, Gary L. and Patrick J. Devieger, 1999, “The Disability Paradox: High Quality of Life Against All Odds”, Social Science and Medicine, 48(8): 977–988. doi:10.1016/S0277-9536(98)00411-0
- Allen, Anita L., 1996, “Does a Child Have a Right to a Certain Identity?”, in Rosalind Ekman Ladd (ed.), Children’s Rights Re-visioned, Belmont: Wordsworth, pp. 98–106.
- Appiah, Kwame Anthony, 1995, “The Uncompleted Argument: DuBois and the Illusion of Race”, in Linda A. Bell and David Blumenfeld (eds.), Overcoming Racism and Sexism, Lanham, MD: Rowman and Littlefield.
- –––, 1996, “Race, Culture, Identity: Misunderstood Connections”, in Kwame Anthony Appiah and Amy Gutmann (eds.), Color Conscious, Princeton: Princeton University Press.
- Archard, David, 2010, “The Obligations and Responsibilities of Parenthood”, in Archard and Benatar 2010: 103–12. doi:10.1093/acprof:oso/9780199590704.003.0005
- Archard, David, and David Benatar, (eds.), 2010, Parenthood and Procreation: The Ethics of Bearing and Rearing Children, Oxford: Oxford University Press. doi:10.1093/acprof:oso/9780199590704.001.0001
- Asch, Adrienne, 2003, “Disability Equality and Prenatal Testing: Contradictory or Compatible”, Florida State University Law Review, 30(2): 315–342.
- Baylis, Françoise and Carolyn McLeod, 2007, “The Stem Cell Debate Continues: The Buying and Selling of Eggs for Research”, Journal of Medical Ethics, 33(12): 726–731. doi:10.1136/jme.2007.022129
- –––, 2014, Family-Making: Contemporary Ethical Challenges, Oxford: Oxford University Press.
- Bayne, Tim, 2003, “Gamete Donation and Parental Responsibility”, Journal of Applied Philosophy, 20(1): 77–87. doi:10.1111/1468-5930.00236
- Benatar, David, 1999, “The Unbearable Lightness of Bringing into Being”, Journal of Applied Philosophy, 16(2): 173–180. doi:10.1111/1468-5930.00119
- Bennett, Rebecca, 2001, “Antenatal Genetic Testing and the Right to Remain in Ignorance”, Theoretical Medicine and Bioethics, 22(5): 461–471. doi:10.1023/A:1013015019369
- –––, 2009, “The Fallacy of the Principle of Procreative Beneficence”, Bioethics, 23(5): 265–273. doi:10.1111/j.1467-8519.2008.00655.x
- Bernstein, Gaia, 2010 “Regulating Reproductive Technologies: Timing, Uncertainty and Donor Anonymity”, Boston University Law Review, 90(3): 1189–1219.
- Besson, Samantha, 2007, “Enforcing the Child’s Right to Know Her Origins: Contrasting Approaches Under the Convention on the Rights of the Child and the European Convention on Human Rights”, International Journal of Law, Policy and the Family, 21(2): 137–159. doi:10.1093/lawfam/ebm003
- Blustein, Jeffrey, 1997, “Procreation and Parental Responsibility”, Journal of Social Philosophy, 28(2): 79–86. doi:10.1111/j.1467-9833.1997.tb00377.x
- Blyth, Eric and Abigail Farrand, 2004, “Anonymity in Donor-Assisted Conception and the UN Convention on the Rights of the Child”, The International Journal of Children’s Rights, 12(2): 89–104. doi:10.1163/1571818041904290
- Blyth, Eric and Berenice Golding, 2008, “Egg Sharing: A Practical and Ethical Option in IVF?” Expert Review of Obstetrics & Gynaecology, 3(4): 465–473. doi:10.1586/1747422.214.171.1245
- Brake, Elizabeth, 2005, “Fatherhood and Child Support: Do Men Have a Right to Choose?”, Journal of Applied Philosophy, 22(1): 55–73. doi:10.1111/j.1468-5930.2005.00292.x
- –––, 2010, “Willing Parents: A Voluntarist Account of Parental Role Obligations”, in Archard and Benatar 2010: 151–177. doi:10.1093/acprof:oso/9780199590704.003.0007
- Brandt, Reuven, forthcoming, “The Transfer and Delegation of Responsibilities in Gamete Provision”, Journal of Applied Philosophy, first online 2 November 2016. doi:10.1111/japp.12251
- Braverman, Andrea Mechanick, and Lucy Frith, 2014, “Relatedness in Clinical Practice”, in T. Freeman, S. Graham, F. Ebtehaj, and M. Richards (eds.), Relatedness in Assisted Reproduction, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, pp. 129–145. doi:10.1017/CBO9781139814737.009
- Brunet, Laurence and Jean-Marie Kunstmann., 2013, “Gamete Donation in France: The Future of the Anonymity Doctrine”, Medicine, Health Care and Philosophy, 16(1): 69–81. doi:10.1007/s11019-012-9431-7
- Buchanan, Allen, Dan W. Brock, Norman Daniels, and Daniel Wikler, 2000, From Chance to Choice: Genetics and Justice, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
- Cahn, Naomi R., 2009a, “Accidental Incest: Drawing the Line-Or the Curtain-For Reproductive Technology”, Harvard Journal of Law & Gender, 32(1): 59–108.
- –––, 2009b, Test Tube Families: Why the Fertility Market Needs Legal Regulation, New York: New York University Press.
- –––, 2009c, “Necessary Subjects: The Need for a Mandatory National Donor Gamete Databank”, DePaul Journal of Health Care Law, 12(1): 203–224.
- Chisholm, Richard., 2012, “Information Rights and Donor Conception: Lessons from Adoption?” Journal of Law and Medicine, 19(4): 722–741.
- Clark, Brigitte J., 2011, “A Balancing Act: The Rights of Donor-Conceived Children to Know Their Biological Origin”, The Georgia Journal of International and Comparative Law, 40(3): 619–661.
- Curie-Cohen, M., 1980, “The Frequency of Consanguineous Matings Due to Multiple Use of Donors in Artificial Insemination”, American Journal of Human Genetics, 32(4): 589–600. [Curie-Cohen 1980 available online]
- Davis, Dena S. 1997, “Genetic Dilemmas and the Child’s Right to An Open Future”, The Hastings Center Report, 27(2): 7–15. doi:10.2307/3527620
- –––, 2001, Genetic Dilemmas: Reproductive Technology, Parental Choices and Children’s Futures, London: Routledge.
- Deech, Ruth, 1998, “Legal and Ethical Responsibilities of Gamete Banks”, Human Reproduction, 13(supp2): 80–83. doi:10.1093/humrep/13.suppl_2.80
- De Boer, Anthonius, Jan C. Oosterwijk, and Catharine A. Rigters-Aris, 1995, “Determination of a Maximum Number of Artificial Inseminations by Donor Children Per Sperm Donor”, Fertility and Sterility, 63(2): 419–421. doi:10.1016/S0015-0282(16)57382-8
- Fahmy, Melissa Seymour, 2011, “On the Supposed Moral Harm of Selecting for Deafness”, Bioethics, 25(3): 128–136. doi:10.1111/j.1467-8519.2009.01752.x
- Fogg-Davis, Hawley, 2001, “Navigating Race in the Market for Human Gametes”, The Hastings Center Report, 31(5): 13–21. doi:10.2307/3527700
- Fox, Dov, 2009, “Racial Classification in Assisted Reproduction”, The Yale Law Journal, 118(8): 1844–1898.
- Freeman, Michael, 1996, “The New Birth Right”, International Journal of Children’s Rights, 4(3): 273–297. doi:10.1163/157181896X00176
- Freeman, Tabitha, Vasanti Jadva, and Jenna Slutsky, 2016, “Sperm Donors Limited: Regulating Offspring Numbers in Reproductive Donation”, In Golombok et al. 2016: 165–184.
- Frith, Lucy, 2001, “Gamete Donation and Anonymity: The Ethical and Legal Debate”, Human Reproduction, 16(5): 818–824. doi:10.1093/humrep/16.5.818
- Fuscaldo, Giuliana, 2006, “Genetic Ties: Are They Morally Binding?”, Bioethics, 20(2): 64–76. doi:10.1111/j.1467-8519.2006.00478.x
- Glackin, Shane Nicholas, 2010, “Tolerance and Illness: The Politics of Medical and Psychiatric Classification”, Journal of Medicine and Philosophy, 35(4): 1–17. doi:10.1093/jmp/jhq035
- Glover, Jonathan, 2006, Choosing Children: Genes, Disability, And Design, Oxford: Clarendon Press.
- Glover, Jonathan, et al., 1989, Ethics of New Reproductive Technologies: The Glover Report to the European Commission, Illinois: Northern Illinois University Press.
- Golombok, S., A. Brewaeys, M.T. Giavazzi, D. Guerra, F. MacCallum, and J. Rust, 2002, “The European Study of Assisted Reproduction Families: The Transition to Adolescence”, Human Reproduction, 17(3): 830–840. doi:10.1093/humrep/17.3.830
- Golombok, Susan, Rosamund Scott, John B. Appleby, Martin Richards, and Stephen Wilkinson (eds.), 2016, Regulating Reproductive Donation, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press,
- Green, Ronald M., 2008, Babies By Design: The Ethics of Genetic Choice, New Haven: Yale University Press.
- Harris, John, 1985, The Value Of Life: An Introduction to Medical Ethics, London: Routledge.
- –––, 1998, “Rights and Reproductive Choice”, in John Harris and Søren Holm (eds.), The Future Of Human Reproduction: Ethics, Choice and Regulation, Oxford: Clarendon Press, pp. 5–37.
- –––, 2000, “The Welfare of the Child”, Health Care Analysis, 8(1): 27–34. doi:10.1023/A:1009430326447
- –––, 2002, “One Principle and a Fourth Fallacy of Disability Studies”, Journal of Medical Ethics, 28(3): 204. doi:10.1136/jme.28.3.204
- Haslanger, Sally, 2009, “Family, Ancestry and Self: What is the Moral Significance of Biological Ties?”, Adoption & Culture, 2(1): 91–122. [Haslanger 2009 available online]
- Herrisone-Kelly, Peter, 2007, “Parental Love and the Ethics of Sex Selection”, Cambridge Quarterly of Healthcare Ethics, 16(3): 326–335. doi: 10.1017/S0963180107070399
- Heyd, D., 1995, “Prenatal Diagnosis: Whose Right?”, Journal of Medical Ethics, 21(5): 292–297. doi:10.1136/jme.21.5.292
- Hildebrand, Heidi, 1999, “Because They Want to Know: An Examination of the Legal Rights of Adoptees and Their Parents”, Southern Illinois Law Journal, 24: 515.
- Holm, Søren and Rebecca Bennett, 2014, “The Proper Scope of the Principle of Procreative Beneficence Revisited”, Monash Bioethics Review, 32(1–2): 22–32. doi:10.1007/s40592-014-0003-x
- Human Fertilisation and Embryology Authority (HFEA), 2011, Donation Review: Compensation of Donors and Benefits in Kind, (Authority Paper Number [HFEA(19/10/11) 612]). [HFEA 2011 available online]
- –––, 2017, Code of Practice, Edition 8 (revision May 2017), London: HFEA. [HFEA 2012 available online]
- Johnson, Martin H., 1999 “The Medical Ethics of Paid Egg Sharing in the UK: Opinion”, Human Reproduction, 14(7): 1912–1918. doi:10.1093/humrep/14.7.1912
- Kamm, Frances, 2009, “What is and is Not Wrong with Enhancement”, in Julian Savulescu and Nick Bostrom (eds.), Human Enhancement, Oxford: Oxford University Press, pp. 91–130.
- Kass, Leon R. 2003, “Ageless Bodies, Happy Souls: Biotechnology and the Pursuit of Perfection”, The New Atlantis, 1(1): 9–28.
- Kitcher, Philip, 1996, The Lives To Come: The Genetic Revolution and Human Possibilities, London: Penguin.
- Landau, R., 1998, “The Management of Genetic Origins: Secrecy and Openness in Donor Assisted Conception in Israel and Elsewhere”, Human Reproduction, 13(11): 3268–3273. doi:10.1093/humrep/13.11.3268
- Leighton, Kimberly, 2014, “Analogies to Adoption in Arguments Against Anonymous Gamete Donation: Geneticizing the Right to Know”, in Françoise Baylis and Carolyn McLeod (eds.), Family-Making: Contemporary Ethical Challenges, Oxford: Oxford University Press, pp. 239–264. doi:10.1093/acprof:oso/9780199656066.003.0014
- Little, Margaret Olivia, 1999, “Abortion, Intimacy, and the Duty to Gestate”, Ethical Theory and Moral Practice, 2(3): 295–312. doi:10.1023/A:1009955129773
- McDougall, Rosalind, 2007, “Parental Virtue: A New Way of Thinking About the Morality of Parental Actions”, Bioethics, 21(4): 181–190. doi:10.1111/j.1467-8519.2007.00544.x
- McGee, Glenn, Sarah-Vaughan Brakeman, and Andrea D. Gurmankin, 2001, “Gamete Donation and Anonymity: Disclosure to Children Conceived with Donor Gametes Should Not be Optional”, Human Reproduction, 16(10): 2033–2036. doi:10.1093/humrep/16.10.2033
- McWhinnie, A., 2001, “Gamete Donation and Anonymity: Should Offspring from Donated Gametes Continue to be Denied Knowledge of Their Origins and Antecedents?” Human Reproduction, 16(5): 807–817. doi:10.1093/humrep/16.5.807
- Melo-Martín, Immaculada De, 2014, “The Ethics of Anonymous Gamete Donation: Is There a Right to Know One’s Genetic Origins?”, The Hastings Center Report, 44(2): 28–35. doi:10.1002/hast.285
- National Health Service (NHS), 2015, The NHS Constitution for England, [NHS 2015 available online]
- Nelson, James Lindemann, 1991, “Parental Obligations and the Ethics of Surrogacy: A Causal Perspective”, Public Affairs Quarterly, 5(1): 49–61.
- –––, 2014, “Special Responsibilities of Parents Using Technologically Assisted Reproduction”, in Baylis and McLeod (eds.). 2014: 185–197.
- Nuffield Council on Bioethics, 2013, Donor Conception: Ethical Aspects of Information Sharing, Nuffield Council 2013 available online.
- O’Neill, Onora, 1979, “Begetting, Bearing, and Rearing”, in O. O’Neill and W. Ruddick (eds.), 1979: 25–38.
- O’Neill, Onora and William Ruddick (eds.), 1979, Having Children: Philosophical and Legal Reflections on Parenthood, New York: Oxford University Press.
- Parens, Erik and Adrienne Asch, 1999, “The Disability Rights Critique of Prenatal Genetic Testing: Reflections and Recommendations”, The Hastings Center Report, 29(5): S1–S22. doi:10.2307/3527746
- Parfit, Derek, 1984, Reasons and Persons, Oxford: Clarendon Press. doi:10.1093/019824908X.001.0001
- Parker, Michael, 2007, “The Best Possible Child”, Journal of Medical Ethics, 33(5): 279–283. doi:10.1136/jme.2006.018176
- Pennings, Guido, 2000, “The Right to Choose Your Donor: A Step Towards Commercialization or a Step Towards Empowering the Patient?”, Human Reproduction, 15(3): 508–514. doi:10.1093/humrep/15.3.508
- Pennings, G., C. Autin, W. Decleer, A. Delbaere, L. Delbeke, A. Delvigne, D. De Neubourg, P. Devroey, M. Dhont, T. D’Hooghe, S. Gordts, B. Lejeune, M. Nijs, P. Pauwels, B. Perrad, C. Pirard, & F. Vandekerckhove, 2009, “Cross-Border Reproductive Care in Belgium”, Human Reproduction, 24(2): 3108–3118. doi:10.1093/humrep/dep300
- Plotz, David, 2006, The Genius Factory: The Curious History of the Nobel Prize Sperm Bank, New York: Random House.
- Porter, Lindsey, 2012, “Adoption is Not Abortion-Lite”, Journal of Applied Philosophy, 29(1): 63–78. doi:10.1111/j.1468-5930.2011.00553.x
- –––, 2014, “Why and How to Prefer a Causal Account of Parenthood”, Journal of Social Philosophy, 45(2): 182–202. doi:10.1111/josp.12059
- Prusak, Bernard G., 2011, “The Costs of Procreation”, Journal of Social Philosophy, 42(1): 61–75. doi:10.1111/j.1467-9833.2010.01519.x
- Prainsack, Barbara and Alena Buyx, 2011, “Solidarity: Reflections on An Emerging Concept in Bioethics”, The Nuffield Council on Bioethics, Prainsack & Buyx 2011 available online.
- Rakowski, Eric, 2002, “Who Should Pay for Bad Genes?”, California Law Review, 90(5): 1345–1414.
- Ravitsky, Vardit, 2010, “Knowing Where You Come From: The Rights of Donor-Conceived Individuals and the Meaning of Genetic Relatedness”, Minnesota Journal of Law Science & Technology, 11(2): 655–684.
- –––, 2012, “Conceived and Deceived: The Medical Interests of Donor-Conceived Individuals”, The Hastings Center Report, 42(1): 17–22. doi:10.1002/hast.9
- Resnick, David B., 2001, “Regulating the Market for Human Eggs”, Bioethics, 15(1): 1–25. doi:10.1111/1467-8519.00209
- Roberts, M.A., 2009, “What is the Wrong of Wrongful Disability? from Chance to Choice to Harms to Persons”, Law and Philosophy, 28(1): 1–57. doi:10.1007/s10982-008-9031-0
- Roberts, Melinda A. and David T. Wasserman, 2009, Harming Future Persons: Ethics, Genetics and the Non-Identity Problem, Dordrecht: Springer. doi:10.1007/978-1-4020-5697-0
- Robertson, John A., 1988, “Technology and Motherhood: Legal and Ethical Issues in Human Egg Donation”, Case Western Reserve Law Review, 39(1): 1–38.
- –––, 1994, Children of Choice: Freedom and the New Reproductive Technologies, Princeton: Princeton University Press.
- Ruddick, William, 2000, “Ways to Limit Prenatal Testing”, in Erik Parens and Adrienne Asch (eds.), Prenatal Testing and Disability Rights, Washington: Georgetown University Press, pp. 95–107.
- Samuels, Elizabeth J., 2000, “The Idea of Adoption: An Inquiry into the History of Adult Adoptee Access to Birth Records”, Rutgers Law Review, 53(2): 367–392.
- Sandel, Michael J., 2007, The Case Against Perfection, Cambridge: Belknapp Press
- Sants, H.J., 1964, “Genealogical Bewilderment in Children with Substitute Parents”, British Journal of Medical Psychology, 37(1): 133–142. doi:10.1111/j.2044-8341.1964.tb01981.x
- Savulescu, Julian, 2001, “Procreative Beneficence: Why We Should Select the Best Children”, Bioethics, 15(5–6): 413– 426. doi:10.1111/1467-8519.00251
- –––, 2002, “Deaf Lesbians, ‘Designer Disability,’ and the Future of Medicine”, British Medical Journal, 325: 771–773. doi:10.1136/bmj.325.7367.771
- Savulescu, Julian and Guy Kahane, 2009, “The Moral Obligation to Create Children with the Best Chance of the Best Life”, Bioethics, 23(5): 274–290. doi:10.1111/j.1467-8519.2008.00687.x
- Scott, Rosamund, Clare Williams, Kathryn Ehrich, and Bobbie Farsides, 2012, “Donation of ‘Spare’ Fresh or Frozen Embryos to Research: Who Decides that An Embryo is ‘Spare’ and How Can We Enhance the Quality and Protect the Validity of Consent?”, Medical Law Review, 20(3): 255–303. doi:10.1093/medlaw/fws013
- Spriggs, M., 2002, “Lesbian Couple Create a Child Who is Deaf Like Them”, Journal of Medical Ethics, 28(5): 283. doi:10.1136/jme.28.5.283
- Steinbock, Bonnie, 2004, “Payment for Egg Donation and Surrogacy”, Mount Sinai Journal of Medicine, 71(4): 255–265.
- Steinbock, Bonnie and Ron McClamrock, 1994, “When is Birth Unfair to the Child?”, The Hastings Center Report, 24(6): 15–21. doi:10.2307/3563460
- Strong, Carson, 1997, “The Moral Status of Preembryos, Embryos, Fetuses and Infants”, The Journal of Medicine and Philosophy, 22: 457–478.
- Thompson, Charis, 2007, “Why We Should, in Fact, Pay for Egg Donation”, Regenerative Medicine, 2(2): 203–209. doi:10.2217/174607126.96.36.199
- Turner, A.J. and A. Coyle, 2000, “What Does it Mean to be a Donor Offspring? the Identity Experiences of Adults Conceived by Donor Insemination and the Implications for Counselling and Therapy”, Human Reproduction, 15(9): 2041–2051. doi:10.1093/humrep/15.9.2041
- Vehmas, S., 2001, “Response to ‘Abortion and Assent’ by Rosamund Rhodes and ‘Abortion, Disability, Assent, and Consent’ by Matti Häyry”, Cambridge Quarterly of Healthcare Ethics, 10(4): 433–40.
- Velleman, J. David, 2005, “Family History”, Philosophical Papers, 34(3): 357–378. doi:10.1080/05568640509485163
- –––, 2008, “Persons in Prospect: II. The Gift of Life”, Philosophy & Public Affairs, 36(3): 245–266. doi:10.1111/j.1088-4963.2008.00139_2.x
- Wang, Charlotte, Miao-Yu Tsai, Mei-Hsien Lee, Su-Yun Huang, Chen-Hung Kao, Hong-Nerng Ho, and Chuhsing Kate Hsiao, 2007, “Maximum Number of Live Births Per Donor in Artificial Insemination”, Human Reproduction, 22(5): 1363–1372. doi:10.1093/humrep/del504
- Warnock Committee of Inquiry into Human Fertilisation and Embryology, 1984 Report of the Committee Committee of Inquiry Into Human Fertilisation and Embryology, London: Her Majesty’s Stationary Office. [Warnock Committee 1984 available online]
- Weinberg, Rivka, 2008, “The Moral Complexity of Sperm Donation”, Bioethics, 22(3): 166–178. doi:10.1111/j.1467-8519.2007.00624.x
- Wilkinson, Stephen, 2003, Bodies for Sale: Ethics and Exploitation in the Human Body Trade, London: Routledge.
- –––, 2010, Choosing Tomorrow’s Children: The Ethics of Selective Reproduction, Oxford: Oxford University Press. doi:10.1093/acprof:oso/9780199273966.001.0001
- –––, 2013, “Is the HFEA’s Policy on Compensating Egg Donors and Egg Sharers Defensible?”, Medical Law Review, 21(2): 173–212. doi:10.1093/medlaw/fws027
- –––, 2016, “Gamete Donor Motives, Payment and Child Welfare”, in Golombok et al. (eds.) 2016: 207–231.
- Wilkinson, Stephen and E. Garrard, 1996, “Bodily Integrity and the Sale of Human Organs”. Journal of Medical Ethics, 22(6): 334–339. doi:10.1136/jme.22.6.334
- Williams, Nicola Jane, 2017, “Harms to ‘Others’ and the Selection Against Disability View”, Journal of Medicine and Philosophy, 42(2): 154–183. doi:10.1093/jmp/jhw067
- Wright, Katharine, 2016, “Limiting Offspring Numbers: Can We Justify Regulation?”, in Golombok et al. 2016: 185–206.
- Zack, Naomi, 1993, Race and Mixed Race, Philadelphia: Temple University Press.
- –––, 2002, Philosophy of Science and Race, New York: Routledge.
How to cite this entry. Preview the PDF version of this entry at the Friends of the SEP Society. Look up this entry topic at the Internet Philosophy Ontology Project (InPhO). Enhanced bibliography for this entry at PhilPapers, with links to its database.
Other Internet Resources
- Human Fertilisation and Embryology (HFE) Act 1990 (UK)
- Human Fertilisation and Embryology (HFE) Act 2008 (UK).
This work was supported by the Wellcome Trust [097897/Z/11/Z].