Aristotle

First published Thu Sep 25, 2008

Aristotle (384–322 B.C.E.) numbers among the greatest philosophers of all time. Judged solely in terms of his philosophical influence, only Plato is his peer: Aristotle's works shaped centuries of philosophy from Late Antiquity through the Renaissance, and even today continue to be studied with keen, non-antiquarian interest. A prodigious researcher and writer, Aristotle left a great body of work, perhaps numbering as many as two-hundred treatises, from which approximately thirty-one survive.[1] His extant writings span a wide range of disciplines, from logic, metaphysics and philosophy of mind, through ethics, political theory, aesthetics and rhetoric, and into such primarily non-philosophical fields as empirical biology, where he excelled at detailed plant and animal observation and taxonomy. In all these areas, Aristotle's theories have provided illumination, met with resistance, sparked debate, and generally stimulated the sustained interest of an abiding readership.

Because of its wide range and its remoteness in time, Aristotle's philosophy defies easy encapsulation. The long history of interpretation and appropriation of Aristotelian texts and themes—spanning over two millennia and comprising philosophers working within a variety of religious and secular traditions—has rendered even basic points of interpretation controversial. The set of entries on Aristotle in this site addresses this situation by proceeding in three tiers. First, the present, general entry offers a brief account of Aristotle's life and characterizes his central philosophical commitments, highlighting his most distinctive methods and most influential achievements.[2] Second are General Topics which offer detailed introductions to the main areas of Aristotle's philosophical activity. Finally, there follow Special Topics which investigate in greater detail more narrowly focused issues, especially those of central concern in recent Aristotelian scholarship.

1. Aristotle's Life

Born in 384 B.C.E. in the Macedonian region of northeastern Greece in the small city of Stagira (whence the moniker ‘the Stagirite’), Aristotle was sent to Athens at about the age of seventeen to study in Plato's Academy, then a pre-eminent place of learning in the Greek world. Once in Athens, Aristotle remained associated with the Academy until Plato's death in 347, at which time he left for Assos, in Asia Minor, on the northwest coast of present-day Turkey. There he continued the philosophical activity he had begun in the Academy, but in all likelihood also began to expand his researches into marine biology. He remained at Assos for approximately three years, when, evidently upon the death of his host Hermeias, a friend and former Academic who had been the ruler of Assos, Aristotle moved to the nearby coastal island of Lesbos. There he continued his philosophical and empirical researches for an additional two years, working in conjunction with Theophrastus, a native of Lesbos who was also reported in antiquity to have been associated with Plato's Academy. While in Lesbos, Aristotle married Pythias, the niece of Hermeias, with whom he had a daughter, also named Pythias.

In 343, upon the request of Philip, the king of Macedon, Aristotle left Lesbos for Pella, the Macedonian capital, in order to tutor the king's thirteen-year-old son, Alexander—the boy who was eventually to become Alexander the Great. Although speculation concerning Aristotle's influence upon the developing Alexander has proven irresistible to historians, in fact little concrete is known about their interaction. On the balance, it seems reasonable to conclude that some tuition took place, but that it lasted only two or three years, when Alexander was aged from thirteen to fifteen. By fifteen, Alexander was apparently already serving as a deputy military commander for his father, a circumstance undermining, if inconclusively, the judgment of those historians who conjecture a longer period of tuition. Be that as it may, some suppose that their association lasted as long as eight years.

It is difficult to rule out that possibility decisively, since little is known about the period of Aristotle's life from 341–335. He evidently remained a further five years in Stagira or Macedon before returning to Athens for the second and final time, in 335. In Athens, Aristotle set up his own school in a public exercise area dedicated to the god Apollo Lykeios, whence its name, the Lyceum. Those affiliated with Aristotle's school later came to be called Peripatetics, probably because of the existence of an ambulatory (peripatos) on the school's property adjacent to the exercise ground. Members of the Lyceum conducted research into a wide range of subjects, all of which were of interest to Aristotle himself: botany, biology, logic, music, mathematics, astronomy, medicine, cosmology, physics, the history of philosophy, metaphysics, psychology, ethics, theology, rhetoric, political history, government and political theory, rhetoric, and the arts. In all these areas, the Lyceum collected manuscripts, thereby, according to some ancient accounts, assembling the first great library of antiquity.

During this period, Aristotle's wife Pythias died and he developed a new relationship with Herpyllis, perhaps like him a native of Stagira, though her origins are disputed, as is the question of her exact relationship to Aristotle. Some suppose that she was merely his slave, others infer from the provisions of Aristotle's will that she was a freed woman and likely his wife at the time of his death. In any event, they had children together, including a son, Nicomachus, named for Aristotle's father and after whom his Nicomachean Ethics is presumably named.

After thirteen years in Athens, Aristotle once again found cause to retire from the city, in 323. Probably his departure was occasioned by a resurgence of the always-simmering anti-Macedonian sentiment in Athens, which was free to come to the boil after Alexander succumbed to disease in Babylon during that same year. Because of his connections to Macedon, Aristotle reasonably feared for his safety and left Athens, remarking, as an oft-repeated ancient tale would tell it, that he saw no reason to permit Athens to sin twice against philosophy. He withdrew directly to Chalcis, on Euboea, an island off the Attic coast, and died there of natural causes the following year, in 322.[3]

2. The Aristotelian Corpus: Character and Primary Divisions

Aristotle's writings tend to present formidable difficulties to his novice readers. To begin, he makes heavy use of unexplained technical terminology, and his sentence structure can at times prove frustrating. Further, on occasion a chapter or even a full treatise coming down to us under his name appears haphazardly organized, if organized at all; indeed, in several cases, scholars dispute whether a continuous treatise currently arranged under a single title was ever intended by Aristotle to be published in its present form or was rather stitched together by some later editor employing whatever principles of organization he deemed suitable.[4] This helps explain why students who turn to Aristotle after first being introduced to the supple and mellifluous prose on display in Plato's dialogues often find the experience frustrating. Aristotle's prose requires some acclimatization.

All the more puzzling, then, is Cicero's observation that if Plato's prose was silver, Aristotle's was a flowing river of gold (Ac. Pr. 38.119, cf. Top. 1.3, De or. 1.2.49). Cicero was arguably the greatest prose stylist of Latin and was also without question an accomplished and fair-minded critic of the prose styles of others writing in both Latin and Greek. We must assume, then, that Cicero had before him works of Aristotle other than those we possess. In fact, we know that Aristotle wrote dialogues, presumably while still in the Academy, and in their few surviving remnants we are afforded a glimpse of the style Cicero describes. In most of what we possess, unfortunately, we find work of a much less polished character. Rather, Aristotle's extant works read like what they very probably are: lecture notes, drafts first written and then reworked, ongoing records of continuing investigations, and, generally speaking, in-house compilations intended not for a general audience but for an inner circle of auditors. These are to be contrasted with the “exoteric” writings Aristotle sometimes mentions, his more graceful compositions intended for a wider audience (Pol. 1278b30; EE 1217b22, 1218b34). Unfortunately, then, we are left for the most part, though certainly not entirely, with unfinished works in progress rather than with finished and polished productions. Still, many of those who persist with Aristotle come to appreciate the unembellished directness of his style.

More importantly, the unvarnished condition of Aristotle's surviving treatises does not hamper our ability to glean their philosophical content. His thirty-one surviving works (that is, those contained in the “Corpus Aristotelicum” of our medieval manuscripts that are judged to be authentic) all contain recognizably Aristotelian doctrine; and most of these contain theses whose basic purport is clear, even where matters of detail and nuance are subject to exegetical controversy.

These works may be categorized in terms of the intuitive organizational principles preferred by Aristotle. He refers to the branches of learning as “sciences” (epistêmai), best regarded as organized bodies of learning completed for presentation rather than as ongoing records of empirical researches. Moreover, again in his terminology, natural sciences such as physics are but one branch of theoretical science, which comprises both empirical and non-empirical pursuits. He distinguishes theoretical science from more practically oriented studies, some of which concern human conduct and other of which focus on the productive crafts. Thus, the Aristotelian sciences divide into three: (i) theoretical, (ii) practical, and (iii) productive. The principles of division are straightforward: theoretical science seeks knowledge for its own sake; practical science concerns conduct and goodness in action, both individual and societal; and productive science aims at the creation of beautiful or useful objects (Top. 145a15–16; Phys. 192b8–12; DC 298a27–32, DA 403a27–b2; Met. 1025b25, 1026a18–19, 1064a16–19, b1–3; EN 1139a26–28, 1141b29–32).

(i) The theoretical sciences include prominently what Aristotle calls first philosophy, or metaphysics as we now call it, but also mathematics, and physics, or natural philosophy. Physics studies the natural universe as a whole, and tends in Aristotle's hands to concentrate on conceptual puzzles pertaining to nature rather than on empirical research; but it reaches further, so that it includes also a theory of causal explanation and finally even a proof of an unmoved mover thought to be the first and final cause of all motion. Many of the puzzles of primary concern to Aristotle have proven perennially attractive to philosophers, mathematicians, and theoretically inclined natural scientists. They include, as a small sample, Zeno's paradoxes of motion, puzzles about time, the nature of place, and difficulties encountered in thought about the infinite.

Natural philosophy also incorporates the special sciences, including biology, botany, and astronomical theory. Most contemporary critics think that Aristotle treats psychology as a sub-branch of natural philosophy, because he regards the soul (psuchê) as the basic principle of life, including all animal and plant life. In fact, however, the evidence for this conclusion is scanty. It is instructive to note that earlier periods of Aristotelian scholarship thought this controversial, so that, for instance, even something as innocuous-sounding as the question of the proper home of psychology in Aristotle's division of the sciences ignited a multi-decade debate in the Renaissance.[5]

(ii) Practical sciences are less contentious, at least as regards their range. These deal with conduct and action, both individual and societal. Practical science thus contrasts with theoretical science, which seeks knowledge for its own sake, and, less obviously, with the productive sciences, which deal with the creation of products external to sciences themselves. Both politics and ethics fall under this branch.

(iii) Finally, then, the productive sciences are mainly crafts aimed at the production of artefacts, or of human productions more broadly construed. The productive sciences include, among others, ship-building, agriculture, and medicine, but also the arts of music, theatre, and dance. Another form of productive science is rhetoric, which treats the principles of speech-making appropriate to various forensic and persuasive settings, including centrally political assemblies.

Significantly, Aristotle's tri-fold division of the sciences makes no mention of logic. Although he did not use the word ‘logic’ in our sense of the term, Aristotle in fact developed the first formalized system of logic and valid inference. In Aristotle's framework—although he is nowhere explicit about this—logic belongs to no one science, but rather formulates the principles of correct argumentation suitable to all areas of inquiry in common. It systematizes the principles licensing acceptable inference, and helps to highlight at an abstract level seductive patterns of incorrect inference to be avoided by anyone with a primary interest in truth. So, alongside his more technical work in logic and logical theory, Aristotle investigates informal styles of argumentation and seeks to expose common patterns of fallacious reasoning.

Aristotle's investigations into logic and the forms of argumentation make up part of the group of works coming down to us from the Middle Ages under the heading the Organon (organon = tool in Greek). Although not so characterized in these terms by Aristotle, the name is apt, so long as it is borne in mind that intellectual inquiry requires a broad range of tools. Thus, in addition to logic and argumentation (treated primarily in the Prior Analytics and Topics), the works included in the Organon deal with category theory, the doctrine of propositions and terms, the structure of scientific theory, and to some extent the basic principles of epistemology.

When we slot Aristotle's most important surviving authentic works into this scheme, we end up with the following basic divisions of his major writings:

  • Organon
    • Categories (Cat.)
    • De Interpretatione (DI) [On Interpretation]
    • Prior Analytics (APr)
    • Posterior Analytics (APo)
    • Topics (Top.)
    • Sophistical Refutations (SE)
  • Theoretical Sciences
    • Physics (Phys.)
    • Generation and Corruption (Gen. et Corr.)
    • De Caelo (DC) [On the Heavens]
    • Metaphysics (Met.)
    • De Anima (DA) [On the Soul]
    • Parva Naturalia (PN) [Brief Natural Treatises]
    • History of Animals (HA)
    • Parts of Animals (PA)
    • Movement of Animals (MA)
    • Meteorology (Meteor.)
    • Progression of Animals (IA)
    • Generation of Animals (GA)
  • Practical Sciences
    • Nicomachean Ethics (EN)
    • Eudemian Ethics (EE)
    • Magna Moralia (MM) [Great Ethics]
    • Politics (Pol.)
  • Productive Science
    • Rhetoric (Rhet.)
    • Poetics (Poet.)

The titles in this list are those in most common use today in English-language scholarship, followed by standard abbreviations in parentheses. For no discernible reason, Latin titles are customarily employed in some cases, English in others. Where Latin titles are in general use, English equivalents are given in square brackets.

3. Phainomena and the Endoxic Method

Aristotle's basic approach to philosophy is best grasped initially by way of contrast. Whereas Descartes seeks to place philosophy and science on firm foundations by subjecting all knowledge claims to a searing methodological doubt, Aristotle begins with the conviction that our perceptual and cognitive faculties are basically dependable, that they for the most part put us into direct contact with the features and divisions of our world, and that we need not dally with sceptical postures before engaging in substantive philosophy. Accordingly, he proceeds in all areas of inquiry in the manner of a modern-day natural scientist, who takes it for granted that progress follows the assiduous application of a well-trained mind and so, when presented with a problem, simply goes to work. When he goes to work, Aristotle begins by considering how the world appears, reflecting on the puzzles those appearances throw up, and reviewing what has been said about those puzzles to date. These methods comprise his twin appeals to phainomena and the endoxic method.

These two methods reflect in different ways Aristotle's deepest motivations for doing philosophy in the first place. “Human beings began to do philosophy,” he says, “even as they do now, because of wonder, at first because they wondered about the strange things right in front of them, and then later, advancing little by little, because they came to find greater things puzzling” (Met. 982b12). Human beings philosophize, according to Aristotle, because they find aspects of their experience puzzling. The sorts of puzzles we encounter in thinking about the universe and our place within it—aporiai, in Aristotle's terminology—tax our understanding and induce us to philosophize.

According to Aristotle, it behooves us to begin philosophizing by laying out the phainomena, the appearances, or, more fully, the things appearing to be the case, and then also collecting the endoxa, the credible opinions handed down regarding matters we find puzzling. As a typical example, in a passage of his Nicomachean Ethics, Aristotle confronts a puzzle of human conduct, the fact that we are apparently sometimes akratic or weak-willed. When introducing this puzzle, Aristotle pauses to reflect upon a precept governing his approach to philosophy:

As in other cases, we must set out the appearances (phainomena) and run through all the puzzles regarding them. In this way we must prove the credible opinions (endoxa) about these sorts of experiences—ideally, all the credible opinions, but if not all, then most of them, those which are the most important. For if the objections are answered and the credible opinions remain, we shall have an adequate proof. (EN vii 1, 1145b2–7)

Scholars dispute concerning the degree to which Aristotle regards himself as beholden to the credible opinions (endoxa) he recounts and the basic appearances (phainomena) to which he appeals.[6] Of course, since the endoxa will sometimes conflict with one another, often precisely because the phainomena generate aporiai, or puzzles, it is not always possible to respect them in their entirety. So, as a group they must be re-interpreted and systematized, and, where that does not suffice, some must be rejected outright. It is in any case abundantly clear that Aristotle is willing to abandon some or all of the endoxa and phainomena whenever science or philosophy demands that he do so (Met. 1073b36, 1074b6; PA 644b5; EN 1145b2–30).

Still, his attitude towards phainomena does betray a preference to conserve as many appearances as is practicable in a given domain—not because the appearances are unassailably accurate, but rather because, as he supposes, appearances tend to track the truth. We are outfitted with sense organs and powers of mind so structured as to put us into contact with the world and thus to provide us with data regarding its basic constituents and divisions. While our faculties are not infallible, neither are they systematically deceptive or misdirecting. Since philosophy's aim is truth and much of what appears to us proves upon analysis to be correct, phainomena provide both an impetus to philosophize and a check on some of its more extravagant impulses.

Of course, it is not always clear what constitutes a phainomenon; still less is it clear which phainomenon is to be respected in the face of bona fide disagreement. This is in part why Aristotle endorses his second and related methodological precept, that we ought to begin philosophical discussions by collecting the most stable and entrenched opinions regarding the topic of inquiry handed down to us by our predecessors. Aristotle's term for these privileged views, endoxa, is variously rendered as ‘reputable opinions’, ‘credible opinions’, ‘entrenched beliefs’, ‘credible beliefs’, or ‘common beliefs’. Each of these translations captures at least part of what Aristotle intends with this word, but it is important to appreciate that it is a fairly technical term for him. An endoxon is the sort of opinion we spontaneously regard as reputable or worthy of respect, even if upon reflection we may come to question its veracity. (Aristotle appropriates this term from ordinary Greek, in which an endoxos is a notable or honourable man, a man of high repute.) As he explains his use of the term, endoxa are widely shared opinions, often ultimately issuing from those we esteem most: ‘Endoxa are those opinions accepted by everyone, or by the majority, or by the wise—and among the wise, by all or most of them, or by those who are the most notable and having the highest reputation’ (Top. i 1, 100b21–23). Endoxa play a special role in Aristotelian philosophy in part because they form a significant sub-class of phainomena (EN 1154b3-8): because they are the privileged opinions we find ourselves unreflectively endorsing and reaffirming after some reflection, they themselves come to qualify as appearances to be preserved where possible.

For this reason, Aristotle's method of beginning with the endoxa is more than a pious platitude to the effect that it behooves us to mind our superiors. He does think this, as far as it goes, but he also maintains, more instructively, that we can be led astray by the terms within which philosophical problems are bequeathed to us. Very often, the puzzles confronting us were given crisp formulations by earlier thinkers and we find them puzzling precisely for that reason. Equally often, however, if we reflect upon the terms within which the puzzles are cast, we find a way forward; when a formulation of a puzzle betrays an untenable structuring assumption, a solution naturally commends itself. This is why in more abstract domains of inquiry we are likely to find ourselves seeking guidance from our predecessors even as we call into question their ways of articulating the problems we are confronting.

Aristotle applies his method of running through the phainomena and collecting the endoxa widely, in nearly every area of his philosophy. To take a typical illustration, we find the method clearly deployed in his discussion of time in Physics iv 10–14. We begin with a phainomenon: we feel sure that time exists or at least that time passes. So much is, inescapably, how our world appears: we experience time as passing, as unidirectional, as unrecoverable when lost. Yet when we move to offer an account of what time might be, we find ourselves flummoxed. For guidance, we turn to what has been said about time by those who have reflected upon its nature. It emerges directly that both philosophers and natural scientists have raised problems about time.

As Aristotle sets them out, these problems take the form of puzzles, or aporiai, regarding whether and if so how time exists (Phys. 218a8–30). If we say that time is the totality of the past, present and future, we immediately find someone objecting that time exists but that the past and future do not. According to the objector, only the present exists. If we retort then that time is what did exist, what exists at present and what will exist, then we notice first that our account is insufficient: after all, there are many things which did, do, or will exist, but these are things that are in time and so not the same as time itself. We further see that our account already threatens circularity, since to say that something did or will exist seems only to say that it existed at an earlier time or will come to exist at a later time. Then again we find someone objecting to our account that even the notion of the present is troubling. After all, either the present is constantly changing or it remains forever the same. If it remains forever the same, then the current present is the same as the present of 10,000 years ago; yet that is absurd. If it is constantly changing, then no two presents are the same, in which case a past present must have come into and out of existence before the present present. When? Either it went out of existence even as it came into existence, which seems odd to say the least, or it went out of existence at some instant after it came into existence, in which case, again, two presents must have existed at the same instant.

In setting such aporiai, Aristotle does not mean to endorse any given endoxon on one side or the other. Rather, he thinks that such considerations present credible puzzles, reflection upon which may steer us towards a deeper understanding of the nature of time. In this way, aporiai bring into sharp relief the issues requiring attention if progress is to be made. Thus, by reflecting upon the aporiai regarding time, we are led immediately to think about duration and divisibility, about quanta and continua, and about a variety of categorial questions. That is, if time exists, then what sort of thing is it? Is it the sort of thing which exists absolutely and independently? Or is it rather the sort of thing which, like a surface, depends upon other things for its existence? When we begin to address these sorts of questions, we also begin to ascertain the sorts of assumptions at play in the endoxa coming down to us regarding the nature of time. Consequently, when we collect the endoxa and survey them critically, we learn something about our quarry, in this case about the nature of time—and crucially also something about the constellation of concepts which must be refined if we are to make genuine philosophical progress with respect to it. What holds in the case of time, contends Aristotle, holds generally. This is why he characteristically begins a philosophical inquiry by presenting the phainomena, collecting the endoxa, and running through the puzzles to which they give rise.

4. Logic, Science, and Dialectic

Aristotle's reliance on endoxa takes on a still greater significance given the role such opinions play in dialectic, which he regards as an important form of non-scientific reasoning. Dialectic, like science (epistêmê), trades in logical inference; but science requires premises of a sort beyond the scope of ordinary dialectical reasoning. Whereas science relies upon premises which are necessary and known to be so, a dialectical discussion can proceed by relying on endoxa, and so can claim only to be as secure as the endoxa upon which it relies. This is not a problem, suggests Aristotle, since we often reason fruitfully and well in circumstances where we cannot claim to have attained scientific understanding. Minimally, however, all reasoning—whether scientific or dialectical—must respect the canons of logic and inference.

4.1 Logic

Among the great achievements to which Aristotle can lay claim is the first systematic treatment of the principles of correct reasoning, the first logic. Although today we recognize many forms of logic beyond Aristotle's, it remains true that he not only developed a theory of deduction, now called syllogistic, but added to it a modal syllogistic and went a long way towards proving some meta-theorems pertinent to these systems. Of course, philosophers before Aristotle reasoned well or reasoned poorly, and the competent among them had a secure working grasp of the principles of validity and soundness in argumentation. No-one before Aristotle, however, developed a systematic treatment of the principles governing correct inference; and no-one before him attempted to codify the formal and syntactic principles at play in such inference. Aristotle somewhat uncharacteristically draws attention to this fact at the end of a discussion of logic inference and fallacy:

Once you have surveyed our work, if it seems to you that our system has developed adequately in comparison with other treatments arising from the tradition to date—bearing in mind how things were at the beginning of our inquiry—it falls to you, our students, to be indulgent with respect to any omissions in our system, and to feel a great debt of gratitude for the discoveries it contains. (Soph. Ref. 184b2–8)

Even if we now regard it as commonplace that his logic is but a fraction of the logic we know and use, Aristotle's accomplishment was so encompassing that no less a figure than Kant, writing over two millennia after the appearance of Aristotle's treatises on logic, found it easy to offer an appropriately laudatory judgment: ‘That from the earliest times logic has traveled a secure course can be seen from the fact that since the time of Aristotle it has not had to go a single step backwards…What is further remarkable about logic is that until now it has also been unable to take a single step forward, and therefore seems to all appearance to be finished and complete’ (Critique of Pure Reason B vii).

In Aristotle's logic, the basic ingredients of reasoning are given in terms of inclusion and exclusion relations, of the sort graphically captured many years later by the device of Venn diagrams. He begins with the notion of a patently correct sort of argument, one whose evident and unassailable acceptability induces Aristotle to refer to is as a ‘perfect deduction’ (APr. 24b22–25). Generally, a deduction (sullogismon), according to Aristotle, is a valid or acceptable argument. More exactly, a deduction is ‘an argument in which when certain things are laid down something else follows of necessity in virtue of their being so’ (APr. 24b18–20). His view of deductions is, then, akin to a notion of validity, though there are some minor differences. For example, Aristotle insists that irrelevant premises will ruin a deduction, whereas validity is indifferent to irrelevance or indeed to the addition of premises of any kind to an already valid argument. Moreover, Aristotle insists that deductions make progress, whereas every inference from p to p is trivially valid. Still, Aristotle's general conception of deduction is sufficiently close to validity that we may pass into speaking in terms of valid structures when characterizing his syllogistic. In general, he contends that a deduction is the sort of argument whose structure guarantees its validity, irrespective of the truth or falsity of its premises. This holds intuitively for the following structure:

  1. All As are Bs.
  2. All Bs are Cs.
  3. Hence, all As are Cs.

Accordingly, anything taking this form will be a deduction in Aristotle's sense. Let the As, Bs, and Cs be anything at all, and if indeed the As are Bs, and the Bs Cs, then of necessity the As will be Cs. This particular deduction is perfect because its validity needs no proof, and perhaps because it admits of no proof either: any proof would seem to rely ultimately upon the intuitive validity of this sort of argument.

Aristotle seeks to exploit the intuitive validity of perfect deductions in a surprisingly bold way, given the infancy of his subject: he thinks he can establish principles of transformation in terms of which every deduction (or, more precisely, every non-modal deduction) can be translated into a perfect deduction. He contends that by using such transformations we can place all deduction on a firm footing.

If we focus on just the simplest kinds of deduction, Aristotle's procedure comes quickly into view. The perfect deduction already presented is an instance of universal affirmation: all As are Bs; all Bs Cs; and so, all As are Cs. Now, contends Aristotle, it is possible to run through all combinations of simple premises and display their basic inferential structures and then to relate them back to this and similarly perfect deductions. Thus, if we vary the quantity of a proposition's subject (universal all versus indeterminate some) along with the quality or kind of the predication (positive versus negative), we arrive at all the possible combinations of the most basic kind of arguments.

It turns out that some of these arguments are deductions, or valid syllogisms, and some are not. Those which are not admit of counterexamples, whereas those which are, of course, do not. There are counterexamples to those, for instance, suffering from what came to be called undistributed middle terms, e.g.: all As are Bs; some Bs are Cs; so, all As are Cs (all university students are literate; some literate people read poetry; so, all university students read poetry). There is no counterexample to the perfect deduction in the form of a universal affirmation: if all As are Bs, and all Bs Cs, then there is no escaping the fact that all As are Cs. So, if all the kinds of deductions possible can be reduced to the intuitively valid sorts, then the validity of all can be vouchsafed.

To effect this sort of reduction, Aristotle relies upon a series of meta-theorems, some of which he proves and others of which he merely reports (though it turns out that they do all indeed admit of proofs). His principles are meta-theorems in the sense that no argument can run afoul of them and still qualify as a genuine deduction. They include such theorems as: (i) no deduction contains two negative premises; (ii) a deduction with a negative conclusion must have a negative premise; (iii) a deduction with a universal conclusion requires two universal premises; and (iv) a deduction with a negative conclusion requires exactly one negative premise. He does, in fact, offer proofs for the most significant of his meta-theorems, so that we can be assured that all deductions in his system are valid, even when their validity is difficult to grasp immediately.

In developing and proving these meta-theorems of logic, Aristotle charts territory left unexplored before him and unimproved for many centuries after his death.

For a fuller account of Aristotle's achievements in logic, see the entry on Aristotle's Logic.

4.2 Science

Aristotle approaches the study of logic not as an end in itself, but with a view to its role in human inquiry and explanation. Logic is a tool, he thinks, one making an important but incomplete contribution to science and dialectic. Its contribution is incomplete because science (epistêmê) employs arguments which are more than mere deductions. A deduction is minimally a valid syllogism, and certainly science must employ arguments passing this threshold. Still, science needs more: a science proceeds by organizing the data in its domain into a series of arguments which, beyond being deductions, feature premises which are necessary and, as Aristotle says, “better known by nature”, or “more intelligible by nature” (gnôrimôteron phusei) (APo. 71b33–72a25; Top. 141b3–14; Phys. 184a16–23). By this he means that they should reveal the genuine, mind-independent natures of things.

He further insists that science (epistêmê)—a comparatively broad term in his usage, since it extends to fields of inquiry like mathematics and metaphysics no less than the empirical sciences—not only reports the facts but also explains them by displaying their priority relations (APo. 78a22–28). That is, science explains what is less well known by what is better known and more fundamental, and what is explanatorily anemic by what is explanatorily fruitful.

We may, for instance, wish to know why trees lose their leaves in the autumn. We may say, rightly, that this is due to the wind blowing through them. Still, this is not a deep or general explanation, since the wind blows equally at other times of year without the same result. A deeper explanation—one unavailable to Aristotle but illustrating his view nicely—is more general, and also more causal in character: trees shed their leaves because diminished sunlight in the autumn inhibits the production of chlorophyll, which is required for photosynthesis, and without photosynthesis trees go dormant. Importantly, science should not only record these facts but also display them in their correct explanatory order. That is, although a deciduous tree which fails to photosynthesize is also a tree lacking in chlorophyll production, its failing to produce chlorophyll explains its inability to photosynthesize and not the other way around. This sort of asymmetry must be captured in scientific explanation. Aristotle's method of scientific exposition is designed precisely to discharge this requirement.

Science seeks to capture not only the causal asymmetries in nature, but also its deep, invariant patterns. Consequently, in addition to being explanatorily basic, the first premise in a scientific deduction will be necessary. So, says Aristotle:

We think we understand a thing without qualification, and not in the sophistic, accidental way, whenever we think we know the cause in virtue of which something is—that it is the cause of that very thing—and also know that this cannot be otherwise. Clearly, knowledge (epistêmê) is something of this sort. After all, both those with knowledge and those without it suppose that this is so—although only those with knowledge are actually in this condition. Hence, whatever is known without qualification cannot be otherwise. (APo 71b9–16; cf. APo 71b33–72a5; Top. 141b3–14, Phys. 184a10–23; Met. 1029b3–13)

For this reason, science requires more than mere deduction. Altogether, then, the currency of science is demonstration (apodeixis), where a demonstration is a deduction with premises revealing the causal structures of the world, set forth so as to capture what is necessary and to reveal what is better known and more intelligible by nature (APo 71b33–72a5, Phys. 184a16–23, EN 1095b2–4).

Aristotle's approach to the appropriate form of scientific explanation invites reflection upon a troubling epistemological question: how does demonstration begin? If we are to lay out demonstrations such that the less well known is inferred by means of deduction from the better known, then unless we reach rock-bottom, we will evidently be forced either to continue ever backwards towards the increasingly better known, which seems implausibly endless, or lapse into some form of circularity, which seems undesirable. The alternative seems to be permanent ignorance. Aristotle contends:

Some people think that since knowledge obtained via demonstration requires the knowledge of primary things, there is no knowledge. Others think that there is knowledge and that all knowledge is demonstrable. Neither of these views is either true or necessary. The first group, those supposing that there is no knowledge at all, contend that we are confronted with an infinite regress. They contend that we cannot know posterior things because of prior things if none of the prior things is primary. Here what they contend is correct: it is indeed impossible to traverse an infinite series. Yet, they maintain, if the regress comes to a halt, and there are first principles, they will be unknowable, since surely there will be no demonstration of first principles—given, as they maintain, that only what is demonstrated can be known. But if it is not possible to know the primary things, then neither can we know without qualification or in any proper way the things derived from them. Rather, we can know them instead only on the basis of a hypothesis, to wit, if the primary things obtain, then so too do the things derived from them. The other group agrees that knowledge results only from demonstration, but believes that nothing stands in the way of demonstration, since they admit circular and reciprocal demonstration as possible. (APo. 72b5–21)

Aristotle's own preferred alternative is clear:

We contend that not all knowledge is demonstrative: knowledge of the immediate premises is indemonstrable. Indeed, the necessity here is apparent; for if it is necessary to know the prior things, that is, those things from which the demonstration is derived, and if eventually the regress comes to a standstill, it is necessary that these immediate premises be indemonstrable. (APo. 72b21–23)

In sum, if all knowledge requires demonstration, and all demonstration proceeds from what is more intelligible by nature to what is less so, then either the process goes on indefinitely or it comes to a halt in undemonstrated first principles, which are known, and known securely. Aristotle dismisses the only remaining possibility, that demonstration might be circular, rather curtly, with the remark that this amounts to ‘simply saying that something is the case if it is the case,’ by which device ‘it is easy to prove anything’ (APo. 72b32–73a6).

Aristotle's own preferred alternative, that there are first principles of the sciences graspable by those willing to engage in assiduous study, has caused consternation in many of his readers. In Posterior Analytics ii 19, he describes the process by which knowers move from perception to memory, and from memory to experience (empeiria)—which is a fairly technical term in this connection, reflecting the point at which a single universal comes to take root in the mind—and finally from experience to a grasp of first principles. This final intellectual state Aristotle characterizes as a kind of unmediated intellectual apprehension (nous) of first principles (APo. 100a10-b6).

Scholars have understandably queried what seems a casually asserted passage from the contingent, given in sense experience, to the necessary, as required for the first principles of science. Perhaps, however, Aristotle simply envisages a kind of a posteriori necessity for the sciences, including the natural sciences. In any event, he thinks that we can and do have knowledge, so that somehow we begin in sense perception and build up to an understanding of the necessary and invariant features of the world. This is the knowledge featured in genuine science (epistêmê). In reflecting on the sort of progression Aristotle envisages, some commentators have charged him with an epistemological optimism bordering on the naïve; others contend that it is rather the charge of naïveté which is itself naïve, betraying as it does an unargued and untenable alignment of the necessary and the a priori.[7]

4.3 Dialectic

Not all rigorous reasoning qualifies as scientific. Indeed, little of Aristotle's extant writing conforms to the demands for scientific presentation laid down in the Posterior Analytics. As he recognizes, we often find ourselves reasoning from premises which have the status of endoxa, opinions widely believed or endorsed by the wise, even though they are not known to be necessary. Still less often do we reason having first secured the first principles of our domain of inquiry. So, we need some ‘method by which we will be able to reason deductively about any matter proposed to us on the basis of endoxa, and to give an account of ourselves [when we are under examination by an interlocutor] without lapsing into contradiction’ (Top. 100a18–20). This method he characterizes as dialectic.

The suggestion that we often use dialectic when engaged in philosophical exchange reflects Aristotle's supposition that there are two sorts of dialectic: one negative, or destructive, and the other positive, or constructive. In fact, in his work dedicated to dialectic, the Topics, he identifies three roles for dialectic in intellectual inquiry, the first of which is mainly preparatory:

Dialectic is useful for three purposes: for training, for conversational exchange, and for sciences of a philosophical sort. That it is useful for training purposes is directly evident on the basis of these considerations: once we have a direction for our inquiry we will more readily be able to engage a subject proposed to us. It is useful for conversational exchange because once we have enumerated the beliefs of the many, we shall engage them not on the basis of the convictions of others but on the basis of their own; and we shall re-orient them whenever they appear to have said something incorrect to us. It is useful for philosophical sorts of sciences because when we are able to run through the puzzles on both sides of an issue we more readily perceive what is true and what is false. Further, it is useful for uncovering what is primary among the commitments of a science. For it is impossible to say anything regarding the first principles of a science on the basis of the first principles proper to the very science under discussion, since among all the commitments of a science, the first principles are the primary ones. This comes rather, necessarily, from discussion of the credible beliefs (endoxa) belonging to the science. This is peculiar to dialectic, or is at least most proper to it. For since it is what cross-examines, dialectic contains the way to the first principles of all inquiries. (Top. 101a26-b4)

The first two of the three forms of dialectic identified by Aristotle are rather limited in scope. By contrast, the third is philosophically significant.

In its third guise, dialectic has a role to play in ‘science conducted in a philosophical manner’ (pros tas kata philosphian epistêmas; Top. 101a27–28, 101a34), where this sort of science includes what we actually find him pursuing in his major philosophical treatises. In these contexts, dialectic helps to sort the endoxa, relegating some to a disputed status while elevating others; it submits endoxa to cross-examination in order to test their staying power; and, most notably, according to Aristotle, dialectic puts us on the road to first principles (Top. 100a18-b4). If that is so, then dialectic plays a significant role in the order of philosophical discovery: we come to establish first principles in part by determining which among our initial endoxa withstand sustained scrutiny. Here, as elsewhere in his philosophy, Aristotle evinces a noteworthy confidence in the powers of human reason and investigation.

5. Essentialism and Homonymy

However we arrive at secure principles in philosophy and science, whether by some process leading to a rational grasping of necessary truths, or by sustained dialectical investigation operating over judiciously selected endoxa, it does turn out, according to Aristotle, that we can uncover and come to know genuinely necessary features of reality. Such features, suggests Aristotle, are those captured in the essence-specifying definitions used in science (again in the broad sense of epistêmê).

Aristotle's commitment to essentialism runs deep. He relies upon a host of loosely related locutions when discussing the essences of things, and these give some clue to his general orientation. Among the locutions one finds rendered as essence in contemporary translations of Aristotle into English are: (i) to ti esti (the what it is); (ii) to einai (being); (iii) ousia (being); (iv) hoper esti (precisely what something is) and, most importantly, (v) to ti ên einai (the what it was to be) (APo 83a7; Top. 141b35; Phys. 190a17, 201a18–21; Gen. et Corr. 319b4; DA 424a25, 429b10; Met. 1003b24, 1006a32, 1006b13; EN 1102a30, 1130a12–13). Among these, the last locution (v) requires explication both because it is the most peculiar and because it is Aristotle's favored technical term for essence. It is an abbreviated way of saying ‘that which it was for an instance of kind K to be an instance of kind K,’ for instance ‘that which it was (all along) for a human being to be a human being’. In speaking this way, Aristotle supposes that if we wish to know what a human being is, we cannot identify transient or non-universal features of that kind; nor indeed can we identify even universal features which do not run explanatorily deep. Rather, as his preferred locution indicates, he is interested in what makes a human being human—and he assumes, first, that there is some feature F which all and only humans have in common and, second, that F explains the other features which we find across the range of humans.

Importantly, this second feature of Aristotelian essentialism differentiates his approach from the now more common modal approach, according to which:[8]

F is an essential property of x =df if x loses F, then x ceases to exist.

Aristotle rejects this approach for several reasons, including most notably that he thinks that certain non-essential features satisfy the definition. Thus, beyond the categorical and logical features (everyone is such as to be either identical or not identical with the number nine), Aristotle recognizes a category of properties which he calls idia (Cat. 3a21, 4a10; Top. 102a18–30, 134a5–135b6), now usually known by their Medieval Latin rendering propria. Propria are non-essential properties which flow from the essence of a kind, such that they are necessary to that kind even without being essential. For instance, if we suppose that being rational is essential to human beings, then it will follow that every human being is capable of grammar. Being capable of grammar is not the same property as being rational, though it follows from it. Aristotle assumes his readers will appreciate that being rational asymmetrically explains being capable of grammar, even though, necessarily, something is rational if and only if it is also capable of grammar. Thus, because it is explanatorily prior, being rational has a better claim to being the essence of human beings than does being capable of grammar. Consequently, Aristotle's essentialism is more fine-grained than mere modal essentialism. Aristotelian essentialism holds:

F is an essential property of x =df (i) if x loses F, then x ceases to exist; and (ii) F is in an objective sense an explanatorily basic feature of x.

In sum, in Aristotle's approach, what it is to be, for instance, a human being is just what it always has been and always will be, namely being rational. Accordingly, this is the feature to be captured in an essence-specifying account of human beings (APo 75a42-b2; Met. 103b1-2, 1041a25-32).

Aristotle believes for a broad range of cases that kinds have essences discoverable by diligent research. He in fact does not devote much energy to arguing for this contention; still less is he inclined to expend energy combating anti-realist challenges to essentialism, perhaps in part because he is impressed by the deep regularities he finds, or thinks he finds, underwriting his results in biological investigation.[9] Still, he cannot be accused of profligacy regarding the prospects of essentialism.

On the contrary, he denies essentialism in many cases where others are prepared to embrace it. One finds this sort of denial prominently, though not exclusively, in his criticism of Plato. Indeed, it becomes a signature criticism of Plato and Platonists for Aristotle that many of their preferred examples of sameness and invariance in the world are actually cases of multivocity, or homonymy in his technical terminology. In the opening of the Categories, Aristotle distinguishes between synonymy and homonymy (later called univocity and multivocity). His preferred phrase for multivocity, which is extremely common in his writings, is ‘being spoken of in many ways’, or, more simply, ‘multiply meant’: pollochôs legomenon). All these locutions have a quasi-technical status for him. The least complex is univocity:

a and b are univocally F iff (i) a is F, (ii) b is F, and (iii) the accounts of F-ness in ‘a is F’ and ‘b is F’ are the same.

Thus, for instance, since the accounts of ‘human’ in ‘Socrates is human’ and ‘Plato is human’ will be the same, ‘human’ is univocal or synonymous in these applications. (Note that Aristotle's notion of synonymy is not the same as the contemporary English usage where it applies to different words with the same meaning.) In cases of univocity, we expect single, non-disjunctive definitions which capture and state the essence of the kinds in question. Let us allow once more for purposes of illustration that the essence-specifying definition of human is rational animal. Then, since human means rational animal across the range of its applications, there is some single essence to all members of the kind.

By contrast, when synonymy fails we have homonymy. According to Aristotle:

a and b are homonymously F iff (i) a is F, (ii) b is F, (iii) the accounts of F-ness in ‘a is F’ and ‘b is F’ do not completely overlap.

To take an easy example without philosophical significance, bank is homonymous in ‘Socrates and Alcibiades had a picnic on the bank’ and ‘Socrates and Alcibiades opened a joint account at the bank.’ This case is illustrative, if uninteresting, because the accounts of bank in these occurrences have nothing whatsoever in common. Part of the interest in Aristotle's account of homonymy resides in its allowing partial overlap. Matters become more interesting if we examine whether—to use an illustration well suited to Aristotle's purposes but left largely unexplored by him—conscious is synonymous across ‘Charlene was conscious of some awkwardness created by her remarks’ and ‘Higher vertebrates, unlike mollusks, are conscious.’ In these instances, the situation with respect to synonymy or homonymy is perhaps not immediately clear, and so requires reflection and philosophical investigation.

Very regularly, according to Aristotle, this sort of reflection leads to an interesting discovery, namely that we have been presuming a univocal account where in fact none is forthcoming. This, according to Aristotle, is where the Platonists go wrong: they presume univocity where the world delivers homonymy or multivocity. (For a vivid illustration of Plato's univocity assumption at work, see Meno 71e1–72a5, where Socrates insists that there is but one kind of excellence (aretê) common to all kinds of excellent people, not a separate sort for men, women, slaves, children, and so on.) In one especially important example, Aristotle parts company with Plato over the univocity of goodness:

We had perhaps better consider the universal good and run through the puzzles concerning what is meant by it—even though this sort of investigation is unwelcome to us, because those who introduced the Forms are friends of ours. Yet presumably it would be the better course to destroy even what is close to us, as something necessary for preserving the truth—and all the more so, given that we are philosophers. For though we love them both, piety bids us to honour the truth before our friends. (EN 1096a11–16)

Aristotle counters that Plato is wrong to assume that goodness is ‘something universal, common to all good things, and single’ (EN 1096a28). Rather, goodness is different in different cases.

To establish non-univocity, Aristotle's appeals to a variety of tests in his Topics where, again, his idiom is linguistic but his quarry is metaphysical. Consider the following sentences:

  • Socrates is good.
  • Communism is good.
  • After a light meal, crème brûlée is good.
  • Trying harder after one has failed is always good.
  • Maria's singing is good, but Renata's is sublime.

Among the tests for non-univocity recommended in the Topics is a simple paraphrase test: if paraphrases yield distinct, non-interchangeable accounts, then the predicate is multivocal. So, for example, suitable paraphrases might be:

  • Socrates is a virtuous person.
  • Communism is just social system.
  • After a light meal, crème brûlée is tasty and satisfying.
  • Trying harder after one has failed is always edifying.
  • Maria's singing reaches a high artistic standard, but Renata's surpasses that standard by any measure.

Since we cannot interchange these paraphrases—we cannot say, for instance, that crème brûlée is a just social system—good must be non-univocal across this range of applications. If that is correct, then Platonists are wrong to assume univocity in this case, since goodness exhibits complexity ignored by their assumption.

So far, then, Aristotle's appeals to homonymy or multivocity are primarily destructive, in the sense that they attempt to undermine a Platonic presumption regarded by Aristotle as unsustainable. Importantly, just as Aristotle sees a positive as well as a negative role for dialectic in philosophy, so he envisages in addition to its destructive applications a philosophically constructive role for homonymy. To appreciate his basic idea, it serves to reflect upon a continuum of positions in philosophical analysis ranging from pure Platonic univocity to disaggregated Wittgensteinean family resemblance. One might in the face of a successful challenge to Platonic univocity assume that, for instance, the various cases of goodness have nothing in common across all cases, so that good things form at best a motley kind, of the sort championed by Wittgensteineans enamored of the metaphor of family resemblances: all good things belong to a kind only in the limited sense that they manifest a tapestry of partially overlapping properties, as every member of a single family is unmistakably a member of that family even though there is no one physical attribute shared by all of those family members.

Aristotle insists that there is a tertium quid between family resemblance and pure univocity: he identifies, and trumpets, a kind of core-dependent homonymy (also referred to in the literature, with varying degrees of accuracy, as focal meaning and focal connexion).[10] Core-dependent homonyms exhibit a kind of order in multiplicity: although shy of univocity, because homonymous, such concepts do not devolve into patchwork family resemblances either. To rely upon one of Aristotle's own favorite illustrations, consider:

  • Socrates is healthy.
  • Socrates’ exercise regimen is healthy.
  • Socrates’ complexion is healthy.

Aristotle assumes that his readers will immediately appreciate two features of these three predications of healthy. First, they are non-univocal, since the second is paraphraseable roughly as promotes health and the third as is indicative of health, whereas the first means, rather, something more fundamental, like is sound of body or is functioning well. Hence, healthy is non-univocal. Second, even so, the last two predications rely upon the first for their elucidations: each appeals to health in its core sense in an asymmetrical way. That is, any account of each of the latter two predications must allude to the first, whereas an account of the first makes no reference to the second or third in its account. So, suggests Aristotle, health is not only a homonym, but a core-dependent homonym: while not univocal neither is it a case of rank multivocity.

Aristotle's illustration does succeed in showing that there is conceptual space between mere family resemblance and pure univocity. So, he is right that these are not exhaustive options. The interest in this sort of result resides in its exportability to richer, if more abstract philosophical concepts. Aristotle appeals to homonymy frequently, across a full range of philosophical concepts including justice, causation, love, life, sameness, goodness, and body. His most celebrated appeal to core-dependent homonymy comes in the case of a concept so highly abstract that it is difficult to gauge his success without extended metaphysical reflection. This is his appeal to the core-dependent homonymy of being, which has inspired both philosophical and scholarly controversy.[11] At one point, Aristotle denies that there could be a science of being, on the grounds that there is no single genus being under which all and only beings fall (SE 11 172a9–15). One motivation for his reasoning this way may be that he regards the notion of a genus as ineliminably taxonomical and contrastive,[12] so that it makes ready sense to speak of a genus of being only if one can equally well speak of a genus of non-being—just as among living beings one can speak of the animals and the non-animals, viz. the plant kingdom. Since there are no non-beings, there accordingly can be no genus of non-being, and so, ultimately, no genus of being either. Consequently, since each science studies one essential kind arrayed under a single genus, there can be no science of being either.

Subsequently, without expressly reversing his judgment about the existence of a science of being, Aristotle announces that there is nonetheless a science of being qua being (Met. iv 4), first philosophy, which takes as its subject matter beings insofar as they are beings and thus considers all and only those features pertaining to beings as such—to beings, that is, not insofar as they are mathematical or physical or human beings, but insofar as they are beings, full stop. Although the matter is disputed, his recognition of this science evidently turns crucially on his commitment to the core-dependent homonymy of being itself.[13] Although the case is not as clear and uncontroversial as Aristotle's relatively easy appeal to health (which is why, after all, he selected it as an illustration), we are supposed to be able upon reflection to detect an analogous core-dependence in the following instances of exists:

  • Socrates exists.
  • Socrates’ location exists.
  • Socrates’ weighing 73 kilos exists.
  • Socrates’ being morose today exists.

Of course, the last three items on this list are rather awkward locutions, but this is because they strive to make explicit that we can speak of dependent beings as existing if we wish to do so—but only because of their dependence upon the core instance of being, namely substance. (Here it is noteworthy that ‘primary substance’ is the conventional and not very happy rendering of Aristotle's protê ousia in Greek, which means, more literally, ‘primary being’).[14] According to this approach, we would not have Socrates’ weighing anything at all or feeling any way today were it not for the prior fact of his existence. So, exists in the first instance serves as the core instance of being, in terms of which the others are to be explicated. If this is correct, then, implies Aristotle, being is a core-dependent homonym; further, a science of being becomes possible, even though there is no genus of being, since it is finally possible to study all beings insofar as they are related to the core instance of being, and then also to study that core instance, namely substance, insofar as it serves as the prime occasion of being.

6. Category Theory

In speaking of beings which depend upon substance for their existence, Aristotle implicitly appeals to a foundational philosophical commitment which appears early in his thought and remains stable throughout his entire philosophical career: his theory of categories. In what is usually regarded as an early work, The Categories, Aristotle rather abruptly announces:

Of things said without combination, each signifies either: (i) a substance (ousia); (ii) a quantity; (iii) a quality; (iv) a relative; (v) where; (vi) when; (vii) being in a position; (viii) having; (ix) acting upon; or (x) a being affected. (Cat. 1b25–27)

Aristotle does little to frame his theory of categories, offering no explicit derivation of it, nor even specifying overtly what his theory of categories categorizes. If librarians categorize books and botanists categorize plants, then what does the philosophical category theorist categorize?

Aristotle does not say explicitly, but his examples make reasonably clear that he means to categorize the basic kinds of beings there may be. If we again take some clues from linguistic data, without inferring that the ultimate objects of categorization are themselves linguistic, we can contrast things said “with combination”:

  • Man runs.

with things said ‘without combination’:

  • Man
  • Runs

‘Man runs’ is truth-evaluable, whereas neither ‘man’ nor ‘runs’ is. Aristotle says that things of this sort signify entities, evidently extra-linguistic entities, which are thus, correlatively, in the first case sufficiently complex to be what makes the sentence ‘Man runs’ true, that is a man running, and in the second, items below the level of truth-making, so, e.g., an entity man, taken by itself, and an action running, taken by itself. If that is correct, the entities categorized by the categories are the sorts of basic beings that fall below the level of truth-makers, or facts. Such beings evidently contribute, so to speak, to the facticity of facts, just as, in their linguistic analogues, nouns and verbs, things said ‘without combination’, contribute to the truth-evaluability of simple assertions. The constituents of facts contribute to facts as the semantically relevant parts of a proposition contribute to its having the truth conditions it has. Thus, the items categorized in Aristotle's categories are the constituents of facts. If it is a fact that Socrates is pale, then the basic beings in view are Socrates and being pale. In Aristotle's terms, the first is a substance and the second is a quality.

Importantly, these beings may be basic without being absolutely simple. After all, Socrates is made up of all manner of parts—arms and legs, organs and bones, molecules and atoms, and so on down. As a useful linguistic analogue, we may consider phonemes, which are basic, relative to the morphemes of a linguistic theory, and yet also complex, since they are made up of simpler sound components, which are irrelevant from the linguist's point of view because of their lying beneath the level of semantic relevance.

The theory of categories in total recognizes ten sorts of extra-linguistic basic beings:

Category Illustration
Substance man, horse
Quality white, grammatical
Quantity two-feet long
Relative double, slave
Place in the market
Time yesterday, tomorrow
Position lying, sitting
Having has shoes on
Acting Upon cutting, burning
Being Affected being cut, being burnt

Although he does not say so overtly in the Categories, Aristotle evidently presumes that these ten categories of being are both exhaustive and irreducible, so that while there are no other basic beings, it is not possible to eliminate any one of these categories in favor of another.

Both claims have come in for criticism, and each surely requires defense.[15] Aristotle offers neither conviction a defense in his Categories. Nor, indeed, does he offer any principled grounding for just these categories of being, a circumstance which has left him open to further criticism from later philosophers, including famously Kant who, after lauding Aristotle for coming up with the idea of category theory, proceeds to excoriate him for selecting his particular categories on no principled basis whatsoever. Kant alleges that Aristotle picked his categories of being just as he happened to stumble upon them in his reveries (Critique of Pure Reason, A81/B107). According to Kant, then, Aristotle's categories are groundless. Philosophers and scholars both before and after Kant have sought to provide the needed grounding, whereas Aristotle himself mainly tends to justify the theory of categories by putting it to work in his various philosophical investigations.

We have already implicitly encountered in passing two of Aristotle's appeals to category theory: (i) in his approach to time, which he comes to treat as a non-substantial being; and (ii) in his commitment to the core-dependent homonymy of being, which introduces some rather more contentious considerations. These may be revisited briefly to illustrate how Aristotle thinks that his doctrine of categories provides philosophical guidance where it is most needed.

Thinking first of time and its various puzzles, or aporiai, we saw that Aristotle poses a simple question: does time exist? He answers this question in the affirmative, but only because in the end he treats it as a categorically circumscribed question. He claims that ‘time is the measure of motion with respect to the before and after’ (Phys. 219b1–2). By offering this definition, Aristotle is able to advance the judgment that time does exist, because it is an entity in the category of quantity: time is to motion or change as length is to a line. Time thus exists, but like all items in any non-substance category, it exists in a dependent sort of way. Just as if there were no lines there would be no length, so if there were no change there would be no time. Now, this feature of Aristotle's theory of time has occasioned both critical and favorable reactions.[16] In the present context, however, it is important only that it serves to demonstrate how Aristotle handles questions of existence: they are, at root, questions about category membership. A question as to whether, e.g., universals or places or relations exist, is ultimately, for Aristotle, also a question concerning their category of being, if any.

As time is a dependent entity in Aristotle's theory, so too are all entities in categories outside of substance. This helps explain why Aristotle thinks it appropriate to deploy his apparatus of core-dependent homonymy in the case of being. If we ask whether qualities or quantities exist, Aristotle will answer in the affirmative, but then point out also that as dependent entities they do not exist in the independent manner of substances. Thus, even in the relatively rarified case of being, the theory of categories provides a reason for uncovering core-dependent homonymy. Since all other categories of being depend upon substance, it should be the case that an analysis of any one of them will ultimately make asymmetrical reference to substance. Aristotle contends in his Categories, relying on a distinction that tracks essential (said-of) and accidental (in) predication, that:

All other things are either said-of primary substances, which are their subjects, or are in them as subjects. Hence, if there were no primary substances, it would be impossible for anything else to exist. (Cat. 2b5–6)

If this is so, then, Aristotle infers, all the non-substance categories rely upon substance as the core of their being. So, he concludes, being qualifies as a case of core-dependent homonymy.

Now, one may challenge Aristotle's contentions here, first by querying whether he has established the non-univocity of being before proceeding to argue for its core-dependence. Be that as it may, if we allow its non-univocity, then, according to Aristotle, the apparatus of the categories provides ample reason to conclude that being qualifies as a philosophically significant instance of core-dependent homonymy.

In this way, Aristotle's philosophy of being and substance, like much else in his philosophy, relies upon an antecedent commitment to his theory of categories. Indeed, the theory of categories spans his entire career and serves as a kind of scaffolding for much of his philosophical theorizing, ranging from metaphysics and philosophy of nature to psychology and value theory.

For this reason, questions regarding the ultimate tenability of Aristotle's doctrine of categories take on a special urgency for evaluating much of his philosophy.

For more detail on the theory of categories and its grounding, see the entry on Aristotle's Categories.

7. The Four Causal Account of Explanatory Adequacy

Equally central to Aristotle's thought is his four-causal explanatory scheme. Judged in terms of its influence, this doctrine is surely one of his most significant philosophical contributions. Like other philosophers, Aristotle expects the explanations he seeks in philosophy and science to meet certain criteria of adequacy. Unlike some other philosophers, however, he takes care to state his criteria for adequacy explicitly; then, having done so, he finds frequent fault with his predecessors for failing to meet its terms. He states his scheme in a methodological passage in the second book of his Physics:

One way in which cause is spoken of is that out of which a thing comes to be and which persists, e.g. the bronze of the statue, the silver of the bowl, and the genera of which the bronze and the silver are species.

In another way cause is spoken of as the form or the pattern, i.e. what is mentioned in the account (logos) belonging to the essence and its genera, e.g. the cause of an octave is a ratio of 2:1, or number more generally, as well as the parts mentioned in the account (logos).

Further, the primary source of the change and rest is spoken of as a cause, e.g. the man who deliberated is a cause, the father is the cause of the child, and generally the maker is the cause of what is made and what brings about change is a cause of what is changed.

Further, the end (telos) is spoken of as a cause. This is that for the sake of which (hou heneka) a thing is done, e.g. health is the cause of walking about. ‘Why is he walking about?’ We say: ‘To be healthy’— and, having said that, we think we have indicated the cause.

(Phys. 194b23–35)

Although some of Aristotle's illustrations are not immediately pellucid, his approach to explanation is reasonably straightforward.

Aristotle's attitude towards explanation is best understood first by considering a simple example he proposes in Physics ii 3. A bronze statue admits of various different dimensions of explanation. If we were to confront a statue without first recognizing what it was, we would, thinks Aristotle, spontaneously ask a series of questions about it. We would wish to know what it is, what it is made of, what brought it about, andwhat it is for. In Aristotle's terms, in asking these questions we are seeking knowledge of the statue's four causes (aitia): the formal, material, efficient, and final. According to Aristotle, when we have identified these four causes, we have satisfied a reasonable demand for explanatory adequacy.

More fully, the four-causal account of explanatory adequacy requires an investigator to cite these four causes:

The Four Causes

The material cause: that from which something is generated and out of which it is made, e.g. the bronze of a statue.
The formal cause: the structure which the matter realizes and in terms of which it comes to be something determinate, e.g., the shape of the president, in virtue of which this quantity of bronze is said to be a statue of a president.
The efficient cause: the agent responsible for a quantity of matter's coming to be informed, e.g. the sculptor who shaped the quantity of bronze into its current shape, the shape of the president.
The final cause: the purpose or goal of the compound of form and matter, e.g. the statue was created for the purpose of honoring the president.

In Physics ii 3, Aristotle makes twin claims about this four-causal schema: (i) that citing all four causes is necessary for adequacy in explanation; and (ii) that these four causes are sufficient for adequacy in explanation. Each of these claims requires some elaboration and also some qualification.

As for the necessity claim, Aristotle does not suppose that all phenomena admit of all four causes. Thus, for example, coincidences lack final causes, since they do not occur for the sake of anything; that is, after all, what makes them coincidences. If a debtor is on his way to the market to buy milk and she runs into her creditor, who is on his way to the same market to buy bread, then she may agree to pay the money owed immediately. Although resulting in a wanted outcome, their meeting was not for the sake of settling the debt; nor indeed was it for the sake of anything at all. It was a simple co-incidence. Hence, it lacks a final cause. Similarly, if we think that there are mathematical or geometrical abstractions, for instance a triangle existing as an object of thought independent of any material realization, then the triangle will trivially lack a material cause.[17] Still, these significant exceptions aside, Aristotle expects the vast majority of explanations to conform to his four-causal schema. In non-exceptional cases, a failure to specify all four of causes, is, he maintains, a failure in explanatory adequacy.

The sufficiency claim is exceptionless, though it may yet be misleading if one pertinent issue is left unremarked. In providing his illustration of the material cause Aristotle first cites the bronze of a statue and the silver of a bowl, and then mentions also ‘the genera of which the bronze and the silver are species’ (Phys. 194b25–27). By this he means the types of metal to which silver and bronze belong, or more generally still, simply metal. That is, one might specify the material cause of a statue more or less proximately, by specifying the character of the matter more or less precisely. Hence, when he implies that citing all four causes is sufficient for explanation, Aristotle does not intend to suggest that a citation at any level of generality suffices. He means to insist rather that there is no fifth kind of cause, that his preferred four cases subsume all kinds of cause. He does not argue for this conclusion fully, though he does challenge his readers to identify a kind of cause which qualifies as a sort distinct from the four mentioned. (Phys. 195a4–5).

So far, then, Aristotle's four causal schema has whatever intuitive plausibility his illustrations may afford it. He does not rest content there, however. Instead, he thinks he can argue forcefully for the four causes as real explanatory factors, that is, as features which must be cited not merely because they make for satisfying explanations, but because they are genuinely operative causal factors, the omission of which renders any putative explanation objectively incomplete and so inadequate.

It should be noted that Aristotle's arguments for the four causes taken individually all proceed against the backdrop of the general connection he forges between causal explanation and knowledge. Because he thinks that the four aitia feature in answers to knowledge-seeking questions (Phys. 194b18; A Po. 71 b 9–11, 94 a 20), some scholars have come to understand them more as becauses than as causes—that is, as explanations rather than as causes narrowly construed.[18] Most such judgments reflect an antecedent commitment to one or another view of causation and explanation—that causation relates events rather than propositions; that explanations are inquiry-relative; that causation is extensional and explanation intensional; that explanations must adhere to some manner of nomic-deductive model, whereas causes need not; or that causes must be prior in time to their effects, while explanations, especially intentional explanations, may appeal to states of affairs posterior in time to the actions they explain.

Generally, Aristotle does not respect these sorts of commitments. Thus, to the extent that they are defensible, his approach to aitia may be regarded as blurring the canons of causation and explanation. It should certainly not, however, be ceded up front that Aristotle is guilty of any such conflation, or even that scholars who render his account of the four aitia in causal terms have failed to come to grips with developments in causal theory in the wake of Hume. Rather, because of the lack of uniformity in contemporary accounts of causation and explanation, and a persistent and justifiable tendency to regard causal explanations as foundational relative to other sorts of explanations, we may legitimately wonder whether Aristotle's conception of the four aitia is in any significant way discontinuous with later, Humean-inspired approaches, and then again, to the degree that it is, whether Aristotle's approach suffers for the comparison. Be that as it may, we will do well when considering Aristotle's defense of his four aitia to bear in mind that controversy surrounds how best to construe his knowledge-driven approach to causation and explanation relative to some later approaches.

For more on the four causes in general, see the entry on Aristotle on Causality.

8. Hylomorphism

Central to Aristotle's four-causal account of explanatory adequacy are the notions of matter (hulê) and form (eidos or morphê). Together, they constitute one of his most fundamental philosophical commitments, to hylomorphism:

  • Hylomorphism =df ordinary objects are composites of matter and form.

The appeal in this definition to ‘ordinary objects’ requires reflection, but as a first approximation, it serves to rely on the sorts of examples Aristotle himself employs when motivating hylomorphism: statues and houses, horses and humans. In general, we may focus on artefacts and familiar living beings. Hylomorphism holds that no such object is metaphysically simple, but rather comprises two distinct metaphysical elements, one formal and one material.

Aristotle's hylomorphism was formulated originally to handle various puzzles about change. Among the endoxa confronting Aristotle in his Physics are some striking challenges to the coherence of the very notion of change, owing to Parmenides and Zeno. Aristotle's initial impulse in the face of such challenges, as we have seen, is to preserve the appearances (phainomena), to explain how change is possible. Key to Aristotle's response to the challenges bequeathed him is his insistence that all change involves at least two factors: something persisting and something gained or lost. Thus, when Socrates goes to the beach and comes away sun-tanned, something continues to exist, namely Socrates, even while something is lost, his pallor, and something else gained, his tan. This is a change in the category of quality, whence the common locution ‘qualitative change’. If he gains weight, then again something remains, Socrates, and something is gained, in this case a quantity of matter. Accordingly, in this instance we have not a qualitative but a quantitative change.

In general, argues Aristotle, in whatever category a change occurs, something is lost and something gained within that category, even while something else, a substance, remains in existence, as the subject of that change. Of course, substances can come into or go out of existence, in cases of generation or destruction; and these are changes in the category of substance. Evidently even in cases of change in this category, however, something persists. To take an example favourable to Aristotle, in the case of the generation of a statue, the bronze persists, but it comes to acquire a new form, a substantial rather than accidental form. In all cases, whether substantial or accidental, the two-factor analysis obtains: something remains the same and something is gained or lost.

In its most rudimentary formulation, hylomorphism simply labels each of the two factors: what remains is matter and what is gained is form. Aristotle's hylomorphism quickly becomes much more complex, however, as the notions of matter and form are pressed into philosophical service. Importantly, matter and form come to be paired with another fundamental distinction, that between potentiality and actuality. Again in the case of the generation of a statue, we may say that the bronze is potentially a statue, but that it is an actual statue when and only when it is informed with the form of a statue. Of course, before being made into a statue, the bronze was also in potentiality a fair number of other artefacts—a cannon, a steam-engine, or a goal on a football pitch. Still, it was not in potentiality butter or a beach ball. This shows that potentiality is not the same as possibility: to say that x is potentially F is to say that x already has actual features in virtue of which it might be made to be F by the imposition of a F form upon it. So, given these various connections, it becomes possible to define form and matter generically as

  • form =df that which makes some matter which is potentially F actually F
  • matter =df that which persists and which is, for some range of Fs, potentially F

Of course, these definitions are circular, but that is not in itself a problem: actuality and potentiality are, for Aristotle, fundamental concepts which admit of explication and description but do not admit of reductive analyses.

Encapsulating Aristotle's discussions of change in Physics i 7 and 8, and putting the matter more crisply than he himself does, we have the following simple argument for matter and form: (1) a necessary condition of there being change is the existence of matter and form; (2) there is change; hence (3) there are matter and form. The second premise is a phainomenon; so, if that is accepted without further defense, only the first requires justification. The first premise is justified by the thought that since there is no generation ex nihilo, in every instance of change something persists while something else is gained or lost. In substantial generation or destruction, a substantial form is gained or lost; in mere accidental change, the form gained or lost is itself accidental. Since these two ways of changing exhaust the kinds of change there are, in every instance of change there are two factors present. These are matter and form.

For these reasons, Aristotle intends his hylomorphism to be much more than a simple explanatory heuristic. On the contrary, he maintains, matter and form are mind-independent features of the world and must, therefore, be mentioned in any full explanation of its workings.

9. Aristotelian Teleology

We may mainly pass over as uncontroversial the suggestion that there are efficient causes in favor of the most controversial and difficult of Aristotle four causes, the final cause.[19] We should note before doing so, however, that Aristotle's commitment to efficient causation does receive a defense in Aristotle's preferred terminology; he thus does more than many other philosophers who take it as given that causes of an efficient sort are operative. Partly by way of criticizing Plato's theory of Forms, which he regards as inadequate because of its inability to account for change and generation, Aristotle observes that nothing potential can bring itself into actuality without the agency of an actually operative efficient cause. Since what is potential is always in potentiality relative to some range of actualities, and nothing becomes actual of its own accord—no pile of bricks, for instance, spontaneously organizes itself into a house or a wall—an actually operative agent is required for every instance of change. This is the efficient cause. These sorts of considerations also incline Aristotle to speak of the priority of actuality over potentiality: potentialities are made actual by actualities, and indeed are always potentialities for some actuality or other. The operation of some actuality upon some potentiality is an instance of efficient causation.

That said, most of Aristotle's readers do not find themselves in need of a defense of the existence of efficient causation. By contrast, most think that Aristotle does need to provide a defense of final causation. It is natural and easy for us to recognize final causal activity in the products of human craft: computers and can-openers are devices dedicated to the execution of certain tasks, and both their formal and material features will be explained by appeal to their functions. Nor is it a mystery where artefacts obtain their functions: we give them their functions. The ends of artefacts are the results of the designing activities of intentional agents. Aristotle recognizes these kinds of final causation, but also, and more problematically, envisages a much greater role for teleology in natural explanation: nature exhibits teleology without design. He thinks, for instance, that living organisms not only have parts which require teleological explanation—that, for instance, kidneys are for purifying the blood and teeth are for tearing and chewing food—but that whole organisms, human beings and other animals, also have final causes.

Crucially, Aristotle denies overtly that the causes operative in nature are intention-dependent. He thinks, that is, that organisms have final causes, but that they did not come to have them by dint of the designing activities of some intentional agent or other. He thus denies that a necessary condition of x's having a final cause is x's being designed.

Although he has been persistently criticized for his commitment to such natural ends, Aristotle is not susceptible to a fair number of the objections standardly made to his view. Indeed, it is evident that whatever the merits of the most penetrating of such criticisms, much of the contumely directed at Aristotle is stunningly illiterate.[20] To take but one of any number of mind-numbing examples, the famous American psychologist B. F. Skinner reveals that ‘Aristotle argued that a falling body accelerated because it grew more jubilant as it found itself nearer its home’ (1971, 6). To anyone who has actually read Aristotle, it is unsurprising that this ascription comes without an accompanying textual citation. For Aristotle, as Skinner would portray him, rocks are conscious beings having end states which they so delight in procuring that they accelerate themselves in exaltation as they grow ever closer to attaining them. There is no excuse for this sort of intellectual slovenliness, when already by the late-nineteenth century, the German scholar Zeller was able to say with perfect accuracy that ‘The most important feature of the Aristotelian teleology is the fact that it is neither anthropocentric nor is it due to the actions of a creator existing outside the world or even of a mere arranger of the world, but is always thought of as immanent in nature’ (1883, §48).

Indeed, it is hardly necessary to caricature Aristotle's teleological commitments in order to bring them into critical focus. In fact, Aristotle offers two sorts of defenses of non-intentional teleology in nature, the first of which is replete with difficulty. He claims in Physics ii 8:

For these [viz. teeth and all other parts of natural beings] and all other natural things come about as they do either always or for the most part, whereas nothing which comes about due to chance or spontaneity comes about always or for the most part. … If, then, these are either the result of coincidence or for the sake of something, and they cannot be the result of coincidence or spontaneity, it follows that they must be for the sake of something. Moreover, even those making these sorts of claims [viz. that everything comes to be by necessity] will agree that such things are natural. Therefore, that for the sake of which is present among things which come to be and exist by nature. (Phys. 198b32–199a8)

The argument here, which has been variously formulated by scholars,[21] seems doubly problematic.

In this argument Aristotle seems to introduce as a phainomenon that nature exhibits regularity, so that the parts of nature come about in patterned and regular ways. Thus, for instance, humans tend to have teeth arranged in a predictable sort of way, with incisors in the front and molars in the back. He then seems to contend, as an exhaustive and exclusive disjunction, that things happen either by chance or for the sake of something, only to suggest, finally, that what is ‘always or for the most part’—what happens in a patterned and predictable way—is not plausibly thought to be due to chance. Hence, he concludes, whatever happens always or for the most part must happen for the sake of something, and so must admit of a teleological cause. Thus, teeth show up always or for the most part with incisors in the front and molars in the back; since this is a regular and predictable occurrence, it cannot be due to chance. Given that whatever is not due to chance has a final cause, teeth have a final cause.

If so much captures Aristotle's dominant argument for teleology, then his view is unmotivated. The argument is problematic in the first instance because it assumes an exhaustive and exclusive disjunction between what is by chance and what is for the sake of something. But there are obviously other possibilities. Second, and this is perplexing if we have represented him correctly, Aristotle is himself aware of one sort of counterexample to this view and is indeed keen to point it out himself: although, he insists, bile is regularly and predictably yellow, its being yellow is neither due simply to chance nor for the sake of anything. Aristotle in fact mentions many such counterexamples (Part. An. 676b16–677b10, Gen. An. 778a29-b6). It seems to follow, then, short of ascribing a straight contradiction to him, either that he is not correctly represented as we have interpreted this argument or that he simply changed his mind about the grounds of teleology. Taking up the first alternative, one possibility is that Aristotle is not really trying to argue for teleology from the ground up in Physics ii 8, but is taking it as already established that there are teleological causes, and restricting himself to observing that many natural phenomena, namely those which occur always or for the most part, are good candidates for admitting of teleological explanation.

That would leave open the possibility of a broader sort of motivation for teleology, perhaps of the sort Aristotle offers elsewhere in the Physics, when speaking about the impulse to find non-intention-dependent teleological causes at work in nature:

This is most obvious in the case of animals other than man: they make things using neither craft nor on the basis of inquiry nor by deliberation. This is in fact a source of puzzlement for those who wonder whether it is by reason or by some other faculty that these creatures work—spiders, ants and the like. Advancing bit by bit in this same direction it becomes apparent that even in plants features conducive to an end occur—leaves, for example, grow in order to provide shade for the fruit. If then it is both by nature and for an end that the swallow makes its nest and the spider its web, and plants grow leaves for the sake of the fruit and send their roots down rather than up for the sake of nourishment, it is plain that this kind of cause is operative in things which come to be and are by nature. And since nature is twofold, as matter and as form, the form is the end, and since all other things are for sake of the end, the form must be the cause in the sense of that for the sake of which. (Phys. 199a20–32)

As Aristotle quite rightly observes in this passage, we find ourselves regularly and easily speaking in teleological terms when characterizing non-human animals and plants. It is consistent with our so speaking, of course, that all of our easy language in these contexts is lax and careless, because unwarrantedly anthropocentric. We might yet demand that all such language be assiduously reduced to some non-teleological idiom when we are being scientifically strict and empirically serious, though we would first need to survey the explanatory costs and benefits of our attempting to do so. Aristotle considers and rejects some views hostile to teleology in Physics ii 8 and Generation and Corruption i.[22]

10. Substance

Once Aristotle has his four-causal explanatory schema fully on the scene, he relies upon it in virtually all of his most advanced philosophical investigation. As he deploys it in various frameworks, we find him augmenting and refining the schema even as he applies it, sometimes with surprising results. One important question concerns how his hylomorphism intersects with the theory of substance advanced in the context of his theory of categories.

As we have seen, Aristotle insists upon the primacy of primary substance in his Categories. According to that work, however, star instances of primary substance are familiar living beings like Socrates or an individual horse (Cat. 2a11014). Yet with the advent of hylomorphism, these primary substances are revealed to be metaphysical complexes: Socrates is a compound of matter and form. So, now we have not one but three potential candidates for primary substance: form, matter, and the compound of matter and form. The question thus arises: which among them is the primary substance? Is it the matter, the form, or the compound? The compound corresponds to a basic object of experience and seems to be a basic subject of predication: we say that Socrates lives in Athens, not that his matter lives in Athens. Still, matter underlies the compound and in this way seems a more basic subject than the compound, at least in the sense that it can exist before and after it does. On the other hand, the matter is nothing definite at all until enformed; so, perhaps form, as determining what the compound is, has the best claim on substantiality.

In the middle books of his Metaphysics, which contain some of his most complex and engaging investigations into basic being, Aristotle settles on form (Met. vii 17). A question thus arises as to how form satisfies Aristotle's final criteria for substantiality. He expects a substance to be, as he says, some particular thing (tode ti), but also to be something knowable, some essence or other. These criteria seem to pull in different directions, the first in favor of particular substances, as the primary substances of the Categories had been particulars, and the second in favor of universals as substances, because they alone are knowable. In the lively controversy surrounding these matters, many scholars have concluded that Aristotle adopts a third way forward: form is both knowable and particular. This matter, however, remains very acutely disputed.[23]

Very briefly, and not engaging these controversies, it becomes clear that Aristotle prefers form in virtue of its role in generation and diachronic persistence. When a statue is generated, or when a new animal comes into being, something persists, namely the matter, which comes to realize the substantial form in question. Even so, insists Aristotle, the matter does not by itself provide the identity conditions for the new substance. First, as we have seen, the matter is merely potentially some F until such time as it is made actually F by the presence of an F form. Further, the matter can be replenished, and is replenished in the case of all organisms, and so seems to be form-dependent for its own diachronic identity conditions. For these reasons, Aristotle thinks of the form as prior to the matter, and thus more fundamental than the matter. This sort of matter, the form-dependent matter, Aristotle regards as proximate matter (Met. 1038b6, 1042b10), thus extending the notion of matter beyond its original role as metaphysical substrate.

Further, in Metaphysics vii 17 Aristotle offers a suggestive argument to the effect that matter alone cannot be substance. Let the various bits of matter belonging to Socrates be labeled as a, b, c, …, n. Consistent with the non-existence of Socrates is the existence of a, b, c, …, n, since these elements exist when they are spread from here to Alpha Centauri, but if that happens, of course, Socrates no longer exists. Heading in the other direction, Socrates can exist without just these elements, since he may exist when some one of a, b, c, …, n is replaced or goes out of existence. So, in addition to his material elements, insists Aristotle, Socrates is also something else, something more (heteron ti; Met. 1041b19–20). This something more is form, which is ‘not an element…but a primary cause of a thing's being what it is’ (Met. 1041b28–30). The cause of a thing's being the actual thing it is, as we have seen, is form. Hence, concludes Aristotle, as the source of being and unity, form is substance.

Even if this much is granted—and to repeat, much of what has just been said is unavoidably controversial—many questions remain. For example, is form best understood as universal or particular? However that issue is to be resolved, what is the relation of form to the compound and to matter? If form is substance, then what is the fate of these other two candidates? Are they also substances, if to a lesser degree? It seems odd to conclude that they are nothing at all, or that the compound in particular is nothing in actuality; yet it is difficult to contend that they might belong to some category other than substance.

For an approach to some of these questions, see the entry on Aristotle's Metaphysics.

11. Living Beings

However these and like issues are to be resolved, given the primacy of form as substance, it is unsurprising to find Aristotle identifying the soul, which he introduces as a principle or source (archê) of all life, as the form of a living compound. For Aristotle, in fact, all living things, and not only human beings, have souls: ‘what is ensouled is distinguished from what is unensouled by living’ (DA 431a20–22; cf. DA 412a13, 423a20–6; De Part. An. 687a24–690a10; Met. 1075a16–25). It is appropriate, then, to treat all ensouled bodies in hylomorphic terms:

The soul is the cause and source of the living body. But cause and source are meant in many ways [or are homonymous]. Similarly, the soul is a cause in accordance with the ways delineated, which are three: it is (i) the cause as the source of motion [=the efficient cause], (ii) that for the sake of which [=the final cause], and (iii) as the substance of ensouled bodies. That it is a cause as substance is clear, for substance is the cause of being for all things, and for living things, being is life, and the soul is also the cause and source of life. (DA 415b8–14; cf. PN 467b12–25, Phys. 255a56–10)

So, the soul and body are simply special cases of form and matter:

soul : body :: form : matter :: actuality : potentiality

Further, the soul, as the end of the compound organism, is also the final cause of the body. Minimally, this is to be understood as the view that any given body is the body that it is because it is organized around a function which serves to unify the entire organism. In this sense, the body's unity derives from the fact it has a single end, or single life directionality, a state of affairs that Aristotle captures by characterizing the body as the sort of matter which is organic (organikon; DA ii 1, 412a28). By this he means that the body serves as a tool for implementing the characteristic life activities of the kind to which the organism belongs (organon = tool in Greek). Taking all this together, Aristotle offers the view that the soul is the ‘first actuality of a natural organic body’ (DA ii 1, 412b5–6), that it is a ‘substance as form of a natural body which has life in potentiality’ (DA ii 1, 412a20–1) and, again, that it ‘is a first actuality of a natural body which has life in potentiality’ (DA ii 1, 412a27–8).

Aristotle contends that his hylomorphism provides an attractive middle way between what he sees as the mirroring excesses of his predecessors. In one direction, he means to reject Presocratic kinds of materialism; in the other, he opposes Platonic dualism. He gives the Presocratics credit for identifying the material causes of life, but then faults them for failing to grasp its formal cause. By contrast, Plato earns praise for grasping the formal cause of life; unfortunately, he then proceeds to neglect the material cause, and comes to believe that the soul can exist without its material basis. Hylomorphism, in Aristotle's view, captures what is right in both camps while eschewing the unwarranted mono-dimensionality of each. In his view, to account for living organisms, one must attend to both matter and form.

Aristotle deploys hylomorphic analyses not only to the whole organism, but to the individual faculties of the soul as well. Perception involves the reception of sensible forms without matter, and thinking, by analogy, consists in the mind's being enformed by intelligible forms. With each of these extensions, Aristotle both expands and taxes his basic hylomorphism, sometimes straining its basic framework almost beyond recognition.

For more detail on Aristotle's hylomorphism in psychological explanation, see the entry on Aristotle's Psychology.

12. Happiness and Political Association

Aristotle's basic teleological framework extends to his ethical and political theories, which he regards as complementing one another. He takes it as given that most people wish to lead good lives; the question then becomes what the best life for human beings consists in. Because he believes that the best life for a human being is not a matter of subjective preference, he also believes that people can (and, sadly, often do) choose to lead sub-optimal lives. In order to avoid such unhappy eventualities, Aristotle recommends reflection on the criteria any successful candidate for the best life must satisfy. He proceeds to propose one kind of life as meeting those criteria uniquely and therefore promotes it as the superior form of human life. This is a life lived in accordance with reason.

When stating the general criteria for the final good for human beings, Aristotle invites his readers to review them (EN 1094a22–27). This is advisable, since much of the work of sorting through candidate lives is in fact accomplished during the higher-order task of determining the criteria appropriate to this task. Once these are set, it becomes relatively straightforward for Aristotle to dismiss some contenders, including for instance the life of pleasure.

According to the criteria advanced, the final good for human beings must: (i) be pursued for its own sake (EN 1094a1); (ii) be such that we wish for other things for its sake (EN 1094a19); (iii) be such that we do not wish for it on account of other things (EN 1094a21); (iv) be complete (teleion), in the sense that it is always choiceworthy and always chosen for itself (EN 1097a26–33); and finally (v) be self-sufficient (autarkês), in the sense that its presence suffices to make a life lacking in nothing (EN 1097b6–16). Plainly some candidates for the best life fall down in the face of these criteria. According to Aristotle, neither the life of pleasure nor the life of honour satisfies them all.

What does satisfy them all is happiness eudaimonia. Scholars in fact dispute whether eudaimonia is best rendered as ‘happiness’ or ‘flourishing’ or ‘living well’ or simply transliterated and left an untranslated technical term.[24] If we have already determined that happiness is some sort of subjective state, perhaps simple desire fulfillment, then ‘happiness’ will indeed be an inappropriate translation: eudaimonia is achieved, according to Aristotle, by fully realizing our natures, by actualizing to the highest degree our human capacities, and neither our nature nor our endowment of human capacities is a matter of choice for us. Still, as Aristotle frankly acknowledges, people will consent without hesitation to the suggestion that happiness is our best good—even while differing materially about how they understand what happiness is. So, while seeming to agree, people in fact disagree about the human good. Consequently, it is necessary to reflect on the nature of happiness (eudaimonia):

But perhaps saying that the highest good is happiness (eudaimonia) will appear to be a platitude and what is wanted is a much clearer expression of what this is. Perhaps this would come about if the function (ergon) of a human being were identified. For just as the good, and doing well, for a flute player, a sculptor, and every sort of craftsman—and in general, for whatever has a function and a characteristic action—seems to depend upon function, so the same seems true for a human being, if indeed a human being has a function. Or do the carpenter and cobbler have their functions, while a human being has none and is rather naturally without a function (argon)? Or rather, just as there seems to be some particular function for the eye and the hand and in general for each of the parts of a human being, should one in the same way posit a particular function for the human being in addition to all these? Whatever might this be? For living is common even to plants, whereas something characteristic (idion) is wanted; so, one should set aside the life of nutrition and growth. Following that would be some sort of life of perception, yet this is also common, to the horse and the bull and to every animal. What remains, therefore, is a life of action belonging to the kind of soul that has reason. (EN 1097b22–1098a4)

In determining what eudaimonia consists in, Aristotle makes a crucial appeal to the human function (ergon), and thus to his overarching teleological framework.

He thinks that he can identify the human function in terms of reason, which then provides ample grounds for characterizing the happy life as involving centrally the exercise of reason, whether practical or theoretical. Happiness turns out to be an activity of the rational soul, conducted in accordance with virtue or excellence, or, in what comes to the same thing, in rational activity executed excellently (EN 1098a161–17). It bears noting in this regard that Aristotle's word for virtue, aretê, is broader than the dominant sense of the English word ‘virtue’, since it comprises all manner of excellences, thus including but extending beyond the moral virtues. Thus when he says that happiness consists in an activity in ‘accordance with virtue’ (kat’ aretên; EN 1098a18), Aristotle means that it is a kind of excellent activity, and not merely morally virtuous activity.

The suggestion that only excellently executed or virtuously performed rational activity constitutes human happiness provides the impetus for Aristotle's virtue ethics. Strikingly, first, he insists that the good life is a life of activity; no state suffices, since we are commended and praised for living good lives, and we are rightly commended or praised only for things we do (EN 1105b20–1106a13). Further, given that we must not only act, but act excellently or virtuously, it falls to the ethical theorist to determine what virtue or excellence consists in with respect to the individual human virtues, including, for instance, courage and practical intelligence. This is why so much of Aristotle's ethical writing is given over to an investigation of virtue, both in general and in particular, and extending to both practical and theoretical forms.

For more on Aristotle's virtue-based ethics, see the entry on Aristotle's Ethics.

Aristotle concludes his discussion of human happiness in his Nicomachean Ethics by introducing political theory as a continuation and completion of ethical theory. Ethical theory characterizes the best form of human life; political theory characterizes the forms of social organization best suited to its realization (EN 1181b12–23).

The basic political unit for Aristotle is the polis, which is both a state in the sense of being an authority-wielding monopoly and a civil society in the sense of being a series of organized communities with varying degrees of converging interest. Aristotle's political theory is markedly unlike some later, liberal theories, in that he does not think that the polis requires justification as a body threatening to infringe on antecedently existing human rights. Rather, he advances a form of political naturalism which treats human beings as by nature political animals, not only in the weak sense of being gregariously disposed, nor even in the sense of their merely benefiting from mutual commercial exchange, but in the strong sense of their flourishing as human beings at all only within the framework of an organized polis. The polis ‘comes into being for the sake of living, but it remains in existence for the sake of living well’ (Pol. 1252b29–30; cf. 1253a31–37).

The polis is thus to be judged against the goal of promoting human happiness. A superior form of political organization enhances human life; an inferior form hampers and hinders it. One major question pursued in Aristotle's Politics is thus structured by just this question: what sort of political arrangement best meets the goal of developing and augmenting human flourishing? Aristotle considers a fair number of differing forms of political organization, and sets most aside as inimical to the goal human happiness. For example, given his overarching framework, he has no difficulty rejecting contractarianism on the grounds that it treats as merely instrumental those forms of political activity which are in fact partially constitutive of human flourishing (Pol. iii 9).

In thinking about the possible kinds of political organization, Aristotle relies on the structural observations that rulers may be one, few, or many, and that their forms of rule may be legitimate or illegitimate, as measured against the goal of promoting human flourishing (Pol. 1279a26–31). Taken together, these factors yield six possible forms of government, three correct and three deviant:

Correct Deviant
One Ruler Kingship Tyranny
Few Rulers Aristocracy Oligarchy
Many Rulers Polity Democracy

The correct are differentiated from the deviant by their relative abilities to realize the basic function of the polis: living well. Given that we prize human happiness, we should, insists Aristotle, prefer forms of political association best suited to this goal.

Necessary to the end of enhancing human flourishing, maintains Aristotle, is the maintenance of a suitable level of distributive justice. Accordingly, he arrives at his classification of better and worse governments partly by considerations of distributive justice. He contends, in a manner directly analogous to his attitude towards eudaimonia, that everyone will find it easy to agree to the proposition that we should prefer a just state to an unjust state, and even to the formal proposal that the distribution of justice requires treating equal claims similarly and unequal claims dissimilarly. Still, here too people will differ about what constitutes an equal or an unequal claim or, more generally, an equal or an unequal person. A democrat will presume that all citizens are equal, whereas an aristocrat will maintain that the best citizens are, quite obviously, superior to the inferior. Accordingly, the democrat will expect the formal constraint of justice to yield equal distribution to all, whereas the aristocrat will take for granted that the best citizens are entitled to more than the worst.

When sorting through these claims, Aristotle relies upon his own account of distributive justice, as advanced in Nicomachean Ethics v 3. That account is deeply meritocratic. He accordingly disparages oligarchs, who suppose that justice requires preferential claims for the rich, but also democrats, who contend that the state must boost liberty across all citizens irrespective of merit. The best polis has neither function: its goal is to enhance human flourishing, an end to which liberty is at best instrumental, and not something to be pursued for its own sake.

Still, we should also proceed with a sober eye on what is in fact possible for human beings, given our deep and abiding acquisitional propensities. Given these tendencies, it turns out that although deviant, democracy may yet play a central role in the sort of mixed constitution which emerges as the best form of political organization available to us. Inferior though it is to polity (that is, rule by the many serving the goal of human flourishing), and especially to aristocracy (government by the best humans, the aristoi, also dedicated to the goal of human flourishing), democracy, as the best amongst the deviant forms of government, may also be the most we can realistically hope to achieve.

For an in-depth discussion of Aristotle's political theory, including his political naturalism, see the entry on Aristotle's Politics.

13. Rhetoric and the Arts

Aristotle regards rhetoric and the arts as belonging to the productive sciences. As a family, these differ from the practical sciences of ethics and politics, which concern human conduct, and from the theoretical sciences, which aim at truth for its own sake. Because they are concerned with the creation of human products broadly conceived, the productive sciences include activities with obvious, artefactual products like ships and buildings, but also agriculture and medicine, and even, more nebulously, rhetoric, which aims at the production of persuasive speech (Rhet. 1355b26; cf. Top. 149b5), and tragedy, which aims at the production of edifying drama (Poet. 1448b16–17). If we bear in mind that Aristotle approaches all these activities within the broader context of his teleological explanatory framework, then at least some of the highly polemicized interpretative difficulties which have grown up around his works in this area, particularly the Poetics, may be sharply delimited.

One such controversy centers on the question of whether Aristotle's Rhetoric and Poetics are primarily descriptive or prescriptive works.[25] To the degree that they are indeed prescriptive, one may wonder whether Aristotle has presumed in these treatises to dictate to figures of the stature of Sophocles and Euripides how best to pursue their crafts. To some extent—but only to some extent—it may seem that he does. There are, at any rate, clearly prescriptive elements in both these texts. Still, he does not arrive at these recommendations a priori. Rather, it is plain that Aristotle has collected the best works of forensic speech and tragedy available to him, and has studied them to discern their more and less successful features. In proceeding in this way, he aims to capture and codify what is best in both rhetorical practice and tragedy, in each case relative to its appropriate productive goal.

The general goal of rhetoric is clear. Rhetoric, says Aristotle, ‘is the power to see, in each case, the possible ways to persuade’ (Rhet. 1355b26). Different contexts, however, require different techniques. Thus, suggests Aristotle, speakers will usually find themselves in one of three contexts where persuasion is paramount: deliberative (Rhet. i 4–8), epideictic (Rhet. i 9), and judicial (Rhet. i 10–14). In each of these contexts, speakers will have at their disposal three main avenues of persuasion: the character of the speaker, the emotional constitution of the audience, and the general argument (logos) of the speech itself (Rhet. i 3). Rhetoric thus examines techniques of persuasion pursuant to each of these areas.

When discussing these techniques, Aristotle draws heavily upon topics treated in his logical, ethical, and psychological writings. In this way, the Rhetoric illuminates Aristotle's writings in these comparatively theoretical areas by developing in concrete ways topics treated more abstractly elsewhere. For example, because a successful persuasive speech proceeds alert to the emotional state of the audience on the occasion of its delivery, Aristotle's Rhetoric contains some of his most nuanced and specific treatments of the emotions. Heading in another direction, a close reading of the Rhetoric reveals that Aristotle treats the art of persuasion as closely akin to dialectic (see §4.3 above). Like dialectic, rhetoric trades in techniques that are not scientific in the strict sense (see §4.2 above), and though its goal is persuasion, it reaches its end best if it recognizes that people naturally find proofs and well-turned arguments persuasive (Rhet. 1354a1, 1356a25, 1356a30). Accordingly, rhetoric, again like dialectic, begins with credible opinions (endoxa), though mainly of the popular variety rather than those endorsed most readily by the wise (Top. 100a29–35; 104a8–20; Rhet. 1356b34). Finally, rhetoric proceeds from such opinions to conclusions which the audience will understand to follow by cogent patterns of inference (Rhet. 1354a12–18, 1355a5–21). For this reason, too, the rhetorician will do well understand the patterns of human reasoning.

For more on Aristotle's rhetoric, see the entry on Aristotle's Rhetoric.

By highlighting and refining techniques for successful speach, the Rhetoric is plainly prescriptive—but only relative to the goal of persuasion. It does not, however, select its own goal or in any way dictate the end of persuasive speech: rather, the end of rhetoric is given by the nature of the craft itself. In this sense, the Rhetoric is like both the Nicomachean Ethics and the Politics in bearing the stamp of Aristotle's broad and encompassing teleology.

The same holds true of the Poetics, but in this case the end is not easily or uncontroversially articulated. It is often assumed that the goal of tragedy is catharsis—the purification or purgation of the emotions aroused in a tragic performance. Despite its prevalence, as an interpretation of what Aristotle actually says in the Poetics this understanding is underdetermined at best. When defining tragedy in a general way, Aristotle claims:

Tragedy, then, is an imitation of an action that is serious and complete, and which has some greatness about it. It imitates in words with pleasant accompaniments, each type belonging separately to the different parts of the work. It imitates people performing actions and does not rely on narration. It achieves, through pity and fear, the catharsis of these sorts of feelings. (Poet. 1449b21–29)

Although he has been represented in countless works of scholarship as contending that tragedy is for the sake of catharsis, Aristotle is in fact far more circumspect. While he does contend that tragedy will effect or accomplish catharsis, in so speaking he does not use language which clearly implies that catharsis is in itself the function of tragedy. Although a good blender will achieve a blade speed of 36,000 rotations per minute, this is not its function; rather, it achieves this speed in service of its function, namely blending. Similarly, then, on one approach, tragedy achieves catharsis, though not because it is its function to do so. This remains so, even if it is integral to realizing its function that tragedy achieve catharsis—as it is equally integral that it makes us of imitation (mimêsis), and does so by using words along with pleasant accompaniments (namely, rhythm, harmony, and song; Poet. 1447b27).

Unfortunately, Aristotle is not completely forthcoming on the question of the function of tragedy. One clue towards his attitude comes from a passage in which he differentiates tragedy from historical writing:

The poet and the historian differ not in that one writes in meter and the other not; for one could put the writings of Herodotus into verse and they would be none the less history, with or without meter. The difference resides in this: the one speaks of what has happened, and the other of what might be. Accordingly, poetry is more philosophical and more momentous than history. The poet speaks more of the universal, while the historian speaks of particulars. It is universal that when certain things turn out a certain way someone will in all likelihood or of necessity act or speak in a certain way—which is what the poet, though attaching particular names to the situation, strives for. (Poet. 1451a38–1451b10)

In characterizing poetry as more philosophical, universal, and momentous than history, Aristotle praises poets for their ability to assay deep features of human character, to dissect the ways in which human fortune engages and tests character, and to display how human foibles may be amplified in uncommon circumstances. We do not, however, reflect on character primarily for entertainment value. Rather, and in general, Aristotle thinks of the goal of tragedy in broadly intellectualist terms: the function of tragedy is ‘learning, that is, figuring out what each thing is’ (Poet. 1448b16–17). In Aristotle's view, tragedy teaches us about ourselves.

That said, catharsis is undoubtedly a key concept in Aristotle's Poetics, one which, along with imitation (mimêsis), has generated enormous controversy.[26] These controversies center around three poles of interpretation: the subject of catharsis, the matter of the catharsis, and the nature of catharsis. To illustrate what is meant: on a naïve understanding of catharsis—which may be correct despite its naïveté—the audience (the subject) undergoes catharsis by having the emotions (the matter) of pity and fear it experiences purged (the nature). By varying just these three possibilities, scholars have produced a variety of interpretations—that it is the actors or even the plot of the tragedy which are the subjects of catharsis, that the purification is cognitive or structural rather than emotional, and that catharsis is purification rather than purgation. On this last contrast, just as we might purify blood by filtering it, rather than purging the body of blood by letting it, so we might refine our emotions, by cleansing them of their more unhealthy elements, rather than ridding ourselves of the emotions by purging them altogether. The difference is considerable, since on one view the emotions are regarded as in themselves destructive and so to be purged, while on the other, the emotions may be perfectly healthy, even though, like other psychological states, they may be improved by refinement. The immediate context of the Poetics does not by itself settle these disputes conclusively.

Aristotle says comparatively more about the second main concept of the Poetics, imitation (mimêsis). Although less controversial than catharsis, Aristotle's conception of mimêsis has also been debated.[27] Aristotle thinks that imitation is a deeply ingrained human proclivity. Like political association, he contends, mimêsis is natural. We engage in imitation from an early age, already in language learning by aping competent speakers as we learn, and then also later, in the acquisition of character by treating others as role models. In both these ways, we imitate because we learn and grow by imitation, and for humans, learning is both natural and a delight (Poet. 1148b4–24). This same tendency, in more sophisticated and complex ways, leads us into the practice of drama. As we engage in more advanced forms of mimêsis, imitation gives way to representation and depiction, where we need not be regarded as attempting to copy anyone or anything in any narrow sense of the term. For tragedy does not set out merely to copy what is the case, but rather, as we have seen in Aristotle's differentiation of tragedy from history, to speak of what might be, to engage universal themes in a philosophical manner, and to enlighten an audience by their depiction. So, although mimêsis is at root simple imitation, as it comes to serve the goals of tragedy, it grows more sophisticated and powerful, especially in the hands of those poets able to deploy it to good effect.

14. Aristotle's Legacy

Aristotle's influence is difficult to overestimate. After his death, his school, the Lyceum, carried on for some period of time, though precisely how long is unclear. In the century immediately after his death, Aristotle's works seem to have fallen out of circulation; they reappear in the first century B.C.E., after which time they began to be disseminated, at first narrowly, but then much more broadly. They eventually came to form the backbone of some seven centuries of philosophy, in the form of the commentary tradition, much of it original philosophy carried on in a broadly Aristotelian framework. They also played a very significant, if subordinate role, in the Neoplatonic philosophy of Plotinus and Porphyry. Thereafter, from the sixth through the twelfth centuries, although the bulk of Aristotle's writings were lost to the West, they received extensive consideration in Byzantine Philosophy, and in Arabic Philosophy, where Aristotle was so prominent that be became known simply as The First Teacher (see the entry on the influence of Arabic and Islamic philosophy on the Latin West). In this tradition, the notably rigorous and illuminating commentaries of Avicenna and Averroes interpreted and developed Aristotle's views in striking ways. These commentaries in turn proved exceedingly influential in the earliest reception of the Aristotelian corpus into the Latin West in the twelfth century.

Among Aristotle's greatest exponents during the early period of his reintroduction to the West, Albertus Magnus, and above all his student Thomas Aquinas, sought to reconcile Aristotle's philosophy with Christian thought. Some Aristotelians disdain Aquinas as bastardizing Aristotle, while some Christians disown Aquinas as pandering to pagan philosophy. Many others in both camps take a much more positive view, seeing Thomism as a brilliant synthesis of two towering traditions; arguably, the incisive commentaries written by Aquinas towards the end of his life aim not so much at synthesis as straightforward exegesis and exposition, and in these respects they have few equals in any period of philosophy. Partly due to the attention of Aquinas, but for many other reasons as well, Aristotelian philosophy set the framework for the Christian philosophy of the twelfth through the sixteenth centuries, though, of course, that rich period contains a broad range of philosophical activity, some more and some less in sympathy with Aristotelian themes. To see the extent of Aristotle's influence, however, it is necessary only to recall that the two concepts forming the so-called binarium famosissimum (“the most famous pair”) of that period, namely universal hylomorphism and the doctrine of the plurality of forms, found their first formulations in Aristotle's texts.

Interest in Aristotle continued unabated throughout the renaissance in the form of Renaissance Aristotelianism. The dominant figures of this period overlap with the last flowerings of Medieval Aristotelian Scholasticism, which reached a rich and highly influential close in the figure of Suárez, whose life in turn overlaps with Descartes. From the end of late Scholasticism, the study of Aristotle has undergone various periods of relative neglect and intense interest, but has been carried forward uninterrupted down to the present day.

Today, philosophers of various stripes continue to look to Aristotle for guidance and inspiration in many different areas, ranging from the philosophy of mind to theories of the infinite, though perhaps Aristotle's influence is seen most overtly and avowedly in the resurgence of virtue ethics which began in the last half of the twentieth century. It seems safe at this stage to predict that Aristotle's stature is unlikely to diminish in the new millennium. If it is any indication of the direction of things to come, a quick search of the present Encyclopedia turns up more citations to ‘Aristotle’ and ‘Aristotelianism’ than to any other philosopher or philosophical movement. Only Plato comes close.

Bibliography

A. Translations

The Standard English Translation of Aristotle's Complete Works into English is:

  • Barnes, J., ed. The Complete Works of Aristotle, Volumes I and II, Princeton: Princeton University Press, 1984.

An excellent translation of selections of Aristotle's works is:

  • Irwin, T. and Fine., G., Aristotle: Selections, Translated with Introduction, Notes, and Glossary, Indianapolis: Hackett, 1995.

B. Translations with Commentaries

The best set of English translations with commentaries is the Clarendon Aristotle Series:

  • Ackrill, J., Categories and De Interpretatione, Translated with notes, Oxford: Oxford University Press, 1963.
  • Annas, J., Metaphysics Books M and N, Translated with a commentary, Oxford: Oxford University Press, 1988.
  • Balme, D., De Partibus Animalium I and De Generatione Animalium I, (with passages from Book II. 1–3), Translated with an introduction and notes, Oxford: Oxford University Press, 1992.
  • Barnes, J., Posterior Analytics, Second Edition, Translated with a commentary, Oxford: Oxford University Press, 1994.
  • Bostock, D., Metaphysics Books Z and H, Translated with a commentary, Oxford: Oxford University Press, 1994.
  • Charlton, W., Physics Books I and II, Translated with introduction, commentary, Note on Recent Work, and revised Bibliography, Oxford: Oxford University Press, 1984.
  • Furley, D. J., ‘What Kind of Cause is Aristotle's Final Cause?,’ in M. Frede and G. Stricker (eds.), Rationality in Greek Thought, Oxford: Oxford University Press, 1999, pp. 59–79
  • Gill, M. L., ‘Aristotle's Metaphysics Reconsidered,’ Journal of the History of Philosophy, 43 (2005): 223–251
  • Graham, D., Physics, Book VIII, Translated with a commentary, Oxford: Oxford Univesity Press, 1999.
  • Hussey, E., Physics Books III and IV, Translated with an introduction and notes, Oxford: Oxford University Press, 1983.
  • Keyt, D., Politics, Books V and VI Animals, Translated with a commentary, Oxford: Oxford University Press, 1999.
  • Kirwan, C., Metaphysics: Books gamma, delta, and epsilon, Second Edition, Translated with notes, Oxford: Oxford University Press, 1993.
  • Kraut, R., Politics Books VII and VIII, Translated with a commentary, Oxford: Oxford University Press, 1998.
  • Lennox., J, On the Parts of Animals, Translated with a commentary, Oxford: Oxford University Press, 2002.
  • Madigan, A., Aristotle: Metaphysics Books B and K 1–2, Translated with a commentary, Oxford: Oxford University Press, 2000.
  • Makin, S., Metaphysics Theta, Translated with an introduction and commentary, Oxford: Oxford University Press, 2006.
  • Pakaluk, M., Nicomachean Ethics, Books VIII and IX, Translated with a commentary, Oxford: Oxford University Press, 1999.
  • Robinson, R., Politics: Books III and IV, Translated with a commentary by Richard Robinson; with a supplementary essay by David Keyt, Oxford: Oxford University Press, 1996.
  • Saunders, T., Politics: Books I and II, Translated with a commentary, Oxford: Oxford University Press, 1996.
  • Shields, Christopher, De Anima, Translated with an introduction and commentary, Oxford: Oxford University Press, 2008.
  • Smith, R., Topics Books I and VIII, With excerpts from related texts, , Translated with a commentary, Oxford: Oxford University Press, 1997.
  • Taylor, C., Nicomachean Ethics, Books II-IV, Translated with an introduction and commentary, Oxford: Oxford University Press, 2006.
  • Williams, C., De Generatione et Corruptione, Translated with a commentary, Oxford: Oxford University Press, 1983.
  • Woods, M., Eudemian Ethics Books I, II, and VIII, Second Edition, Edited, and translated with a commentary, Oxford: Oxford University Press, 1992.

C. General Works

1. Comprehensive Introductions to Aristotle

  • Ackrill, J., Aristotle the Philosopher, Oxford: Oxford University Press, 1981.
  • Jaeger, W., Aristotle: Fundamentals of the History of his Development, Oxford: Oxford University Press, 1934.
  • Lear, J., Aristotle: the Desire to Understand, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 1988.
  • Ross, W. D., Aristotle, London: Methuen and Co., 1923.
  • Shields, C., Aristotle, London: Routledge, 2007.

2. General Guide Books to Aristotle

  • Barnes, J., The Cambridge Companion to Aristotle, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 1995.
  • Anagnostopoulos, G., The Blackwell Guide to Aristotle, Oxford: Blackwell, 2007.
  • Shields, C., The Oxford Handbook on Aristotle, Oxford: Oxford University Press, 2008.

D. Bibliography of Works Cited

  • Annas, J. (1982), ‘Aristotle on inefficient causes,’ Philosophical Quarterly, 32: 311–326.
  • Bakker, Paul J. J. M. (2007), ‘Natural Philosophy, Metaphysics, or Something in Between: Agostino Nifo, Pietro Pompanazzi, and Marcantonio Genua on the Nature and Place of the Science of Soul,’ in J. J. M. Bakker and Johannes M. M. H. Thijssen (eds.), Mind, Cognition, and Representation: The Tradition of Commentaries on Aristotle's De Anima, London: Ashgate, 151–177
  • Barnes, Jonathan (1994), Posterior Analytics, Second Edition, Translated with a commentary, Oxford: Clarendon Press.
  • Biondi, Paolo C. (2004), ed. and trans., Aristotle: Posterior Analytics ii 19, Paris: Librairie-Philosophique-J-Vrin.
  • Bostock, David (1980/2006), ‘Aristotle's Account of Time,‘ in Space, Time, Matter, and Form: Essays on Aristotle's Physics, Oxford: Oxford University Press, 135–157.
  • Charles, David (2001), “Teleological Causation in the Physics,” in L. Judson ed., Aristotle's Physics: A Collection of Essays, Oxford: Oxford University Press, 101–128.
  • Cleary, John, (1994), ‘Phainomena in Aristotle's Philosophic Method,’ International Journal of Philosophical Studies, 2: 61–97
  • Coope, Ursula (2005), Time for Aristotle: Physics IV 10–14, Oxford: Oxford University Press.
  • Duarte, Shane (2007), ‘Aristotle's Theology and its Relation to the Science of Being qua Being,’ Apeiron, 40, 267–318
  • Frede, M. (1980), ‘The Original Notion of Cause,’ in M. Schofield, M. Burnyeat, and J. Barnes edd., Doubt and Dogmatism, Oxford: Oxford University Press, 217–249.
  • Gotthelf, A. (1987), ‘Aristotle's Conception of Final Causality,’ in A. Gotthelf and J. G. Lennox (eds.), Philosophical Issues in Aristotle's Biology, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 204–242.
  • Grote, George (1880), Aristotle, London: Thoemmes Continuum.
  • Halliwell, Stephen (1986), Aristotle's Poetics, Chapel Hill: University of North Carolina Press.
  • Hocutt, M. (1974), ‘Aristotle's Four Becauses.’ Philosophy, 49: 385–399.
  • Irwin, Terence (1981), ‘Homonymy in Aristotle,’ Review of Metaphysics, 34: 523–544
  • ––– (1988), Aristotle's First Principles, Oxford: Oxford University Press.
  • Johnson, Monte Ransom (2005), Aristotle on Teleology, Oxford: Oxford University Press.
  • Kraut, Richard (1979), ‘Two Conceptions of Happiness, Philosophical Review, 88: 167–197.
  • Lewis, Frank A. (2004), ‘Aristotle on the Homonymy of Being,’ Philosophy and Phenomenological Research, 68: 1–36.
  • Loux, Michael, (1973), ‘Aristotle on the Transcendentals,’ Phronesis, 18: 225–239.
  • Moravcsik, J. (1975), ‘“Aitia” as generative factor in Aristotle's philosophy,’ Dialogue, 14: 622–638.
  • Owen, G. E. L. (1960), ‘Logic and Metaphysics in Some Earlier Works of Aristotle,’ in I. During and G. E. L. Owen (eds.), Plato and Aristotle in the Mid-Fourth Century, Göteborg: Almquist and Wiksell, 163–190.
  • ––– (1961/1986), ‘Tithenai ta phainomena,’ Logic, Science and Dialectic, London: Duckworth, 239–251.
  • Owens, Joseph (1978), The Doctrine of Being in the Aristotelian Metaphysics, 3rd edition, Toronto: The Pontifical Institute of Mediaeval Studies.
  • Patzig, Gunther (1979), ‘Theology and Ontology in Aristotle's Metaphysics, in J. Barnes, M. Schofied, and R. Sorabji (eds.), Articles on Aristotle, Volume 3: Metaphysics, London: Duckworth, 33–49.
  • Pellegrin, Pierre (1996/2003), ‘Aristotle,’ in J. Brunschwig and G. E. R. Lloyd (eds.), A Guide to Greek Thought, Cambridge, MA: Harvard University Press, 32–53.
  • Ross, W. D. (1923), Aristotle, London: Methuen and Co.
  • Sauvé Meyer, S. (1992), ‘Aristotle, Teleology, and Reduction,’ Philosophical Review, 101: 791–825.
  • Shields, Christopher (1999), Order in Multiplicity: Homonymy in the Philosophy of Aristotle, Oxford: Oxford University Press.
  • ––– (2007) Aristotle, London: Routledge.
  • Shute, Richard (1888), On the Process by which the Aristotelian Writings Arrived at their Present Form, Oxford: Oxford University Press.
  • Ward, Julie K. (2008), Aristotle on Homonymy, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
  • Zeller, Eduard (1883/1955), Outlines of the History of Greek Philosophy, rev. by W. Nestle, trans. L. Palmer, London: Routledge.

Other Internet Resources

  • Aristotle, maintained by Marc Cohen (Philosophy/University of Washington).

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