First published Tue Oct 26, 2004; substantive revision Thu Feb 19, 2015

“There can be little doubt,” philosopher and biochemist Lenny Moss claimed in 2003, “that the idea of ‘the gene’ has been the central organizing theme of twentieth century biology” (Moss 2003, xiii; cf. Keller 2000, 9). And yet it is clear that the science of genetics never provided one generally accepted definition of the gene. More than a hundred years of genetic research have rather resulted in the proliferation of a variety of gene concepts, which sometimes complement, sometimes contradict each other. Some philosophers and scientists have tried to remedy this situation by reducing this variety of gene concepts, either “vertically” to a fundamental unit, or “horizontally” by subsuming them under a general term. Others have opted for more pluralist stances. As a consequence, “the gene” has become a hot topic in philosophy of science around which questions of reduction, emergence, or supervenience of concepts and theories (along with the epistemic entities they refer to) are lively debated. So far, however, all attempts to reach a consensus regarding these questions have been unsuccessful. Today, since the completion of the human genome sequence and the beginning of what is being called the era of postgenomics, genetics is again experiencing a time of conceptual change. The concept of the gene, emerging out of a century of genetic research, has been and continues to be, as Raphael Falk has reminded us not so long ago, a “concept in tension” (Falk 2000).

The layout of the following article will therefore be largely historical. There exist several accounts of the historical development and diversification of the gene concept, written from the perspective of a history of ideas (Dunn 1965; Stubbe 1965; Carlson 1966, 2004; Schwartz 2008). While we will largely follow the conventional time line of events established by this literature, we will take a slightly different perspective by looking at genes as epistemic objects, i.e., as objects subjected to on-going research. This means that we will not simply relate established concepts of “the” gene, but rather analyze how changing experimental practices and experimental systems determined and modified such concepts (see also the entry on experiment in biology). After having thus established a rich historical “panorama” of the gene as a “concept in flux”, to pick up a suggestive term introduced by Yehuda Elkana (1970; cf. Falk 1986), some more general philosophical themes will be briefly addressed, for which the gene has served as a convenient “handle” in discussion. These revolve around the topic of reduction, but also involve questions about causality in living systems (for fuller accounts see entries on molecular biology, molecular genetics, biological information, and reductionism in biology; for a recent monograph length treatment of philosophical questions regarding genetics, see Griffiths and Stotz 2013).

1. Prehistory of the Gene

Before dealing with the historical stages of the gene concept's tangled development, we will have to see how it came into being. It was only in the nineteenth century that heredity became a major problem to be dealt with in biology (López Beltrán 2004; Müller-Wille and Rheinberger 2007 and 2012). With the rise of heredity as a biological research area the question of its material basis and of its mechanism took shape. In the second half of the nineteenth century, two alternative frameworks were proposed to deal with this question. The first one conceived of heredity as a force whose strength was accumulated over the generations, and which, as a measurable magnitude, could be subjected to statistical analysis. This concept was particularly widespread among nineteenth-century breeders (Gayon and Zallen 1998) and influenced Francis Galton and the so-called “biometrical school” (Gayon 1998, 105-146). The second framework saw heredity as residing in matter that was transmitted from one generation to the next. Two major trends are to be differentiated here. One of them regarded hereditary matter as particulate and amenable to breeding analysis. Charles Darwin, for example, called the presumed hereditary particles “gemmules”; Hugo de Vries, “pangenes”. None of these nineteenth- century authors, however, thought of associating these particles with a particular hereditary substance. They all believed that they consisted of the very same stuff that the rest of the organism was made of, so that their mere growth, recombination and accumulation en masse would make visible the particular traits for which they were responsible. A second category of biologists in the second half of the nineteeenth century, to whom Carl Naegeli and August Weismann belonged, distinguished the body substance, the “trophoplasm” or “soma”, from a specific hereditary substance, the “idioplasm” or “germ plasm”, which was assumed to be responsible for intergenerational hereditary continuity. However, they took this idioplasmic substance as being, not particulate, but highly organized. In the case of Weismann it remained intact in the germ cells, but irreversibly differentiated in the body cells during development. In the case of Naegeli it extended even from cell to cell and throughout the whole body, a capillary hereditary system analogous to the nervous system (Robinson 1979; Churchill 1987, Rheinberger 2008).

Mendel stands out among these biologists, although he worked within a well-defined botanical tradition of hybrid research. He is generally considered as the precursor to twentieth-century genetics (see, however, Olby 1979 and, for a more recent discussion, Orel and Hartl 1997). As Jean Gayon has argued, Mendel's 1865 paper attacked heredity from a wholly new angle, interpreting it not as a measurable magnitude, as the biometrical school did at a later stage, but as “a certain level of organization,” a “structure in a given generation to be expressed in the context of specific crosses.” This is why Mendel applied a “calculus of differences,” i.e., combinatorial mathematics to the resolution of hereditary phenomena (Gayon 2000, 77-78). With that, he introduced a new formal tool for an analysis of hybridization experiments that was at the same time based on a new experimental regime: the selection of pairs of alternative and “constant” (i.e., heritable) traits. Mendel believed that these traits were related by a “constant law of development” to certain “elements” or “factors” in the reproductive cells from which organisms developed. An analysis of the distribution of alternative traits in the progeny of hybrids could therefore reveal something about the relationship that the underlying “factors” entered when united in the hybrid parent organism (Müller-Wille and Orel 2007).

2. The Gene in Classical Genetics

The year 1900 can be seen as the annus mirabilis that gave birth to a new discipline soon to be called genetics. During that year, three botanists, Hugo de Vries, Carl Correns, and Erich Tschermak, reported on their breeding experiments of the late 1890s and claimed to have confirmed the regularities in the transmission of characters from parents to offspring that Mendel had already presented in his seminal paper of 1865 (Olby 1985, 109-37). Basically, in their experimental crosses with Zea mays, Pisum, and Phaseolus, they observed that the elements responsible for pairs of alternative traits, “allelomorphs” in the later terminology of William Bateson (1902), which soon came into general use under the abbreviation of “alleles” segregated randomly in the second filial generation (Mendel's law of segregation), and that these elements were transmitted independently from each other (Mendel's law of independent assortment). The additional observation that sometimes several elements behaved as if they were linked, contributed to the assumption soon promoted by Walter Sutton and by Theodor Boveri that these elements were located in groups on different chromosomes in the nucleus. Thus the chromosome theory of inheritance assumed that the regularities of character transmission were grounded in cytomorphology, in particular the nuclear morphology with its individual chromosomes keeping their identity over the generations (Coleman 1965; Martins 1999).

Despite initial resistance from the biometrical school (Provine 1971; Mackenzie and Barnes 1979), awareness rapidly grew that the possibility of an independent assortment of discrete hereditary factors according to the laws of probability was to be seen as the very cornerstone of a new “paradigm” of inheritance (Kim 1994). This went together after an initial period of conflation by what Elof Carlson called the “unit-character fallacy” (Carlson 1966, ch. 4) with the establishment of a categorical distinction between genetic factors on the one hand and traits or characters on the other hand. The masking effect of dominant traits over recessive ones and the subsequent reappearance of recessive traits were particularly instrumental in stabilizing this distinction (Falk 2001). Furthermore, it resonated with the earlier concept of two material regimes, one germinal and one bodily, already promoted by Naegeli and Weismann.

Yet if—as Correns stated in his first review on the new Mendelian literature in 1901—“we cannot uphold the idea of a permanent fixation [of the hereditary factors] in the germ plasm, but have to assume, because of their miscibility, some mobility at least at certain times,” and if chromosomal coupling was a possible, but not a necessary and general mechanism of conveying structure to inheritance, how was one to explain the successive and regular physiological deployment of the dispositions (Anlagen) in the orderly development of the organism? To resolve this difficulty, Correns came up with the following, as he called it, “heresy”:

I propose to have the locus of the Anlagen, without permanent fixation, in the nucleus, especially in the chromosomes. In addition I assume, outside the nucleus, in the protoplasm, a mechanism that cares for their deployment. Then the Anlagen can be mixed up as they may, like the colored little stones in a kaleidoscope; and yet they unfold at the right place ([1901], quoted from Correns 1924, 279).

In this way, Correns, at the beginning of the first decade of the twentieth century, distinguished a hereditary space with an independent logic and metrics from another, physiological and developmental space represented by the cytoplasm. Toward the end of the first decade of the twentieth century, after Bateson had coined the term genetics for the emerging new field of transmission studies in 1906, Wilhelm Johannsen codified this distinction by introducing the notions of genotype and phenotype, respectively, for these two spaces. In contrast to Correns, Johannsen considered genotyope and phenotype as abstract entities, not confining them to certain cellular spaces and remaining skeptical about the chromosome theory of inheritance throughout his life. In addition, for the elements of the genotype, Johannsen proposed the notion of gene, which for him was a concept “completely free of any hypothesis” regarding localization and material constitution (Johannsen 1909, 124).

Johannsen's codification, which was based on microbiology's “pure culture” approach, breeders' practices of separating “pure lines” as well as Richard Woltereck's notion of an innate “norm of reaction”, was gradually taken up by the genetics community and has profoundly marked all of twentieth century biology (Allen 2002, Müller-Wille 2007). We can safely say that it instituted the gene as an epistemic object to be studied within its proper space, and with that an “exact, experimental doctrine of heredity” (Johannsen 1909, 1) that concentrated on transmission only and not on the development of the organism in its environment. Some historians have spoken of a “divorce” of genetical from embryological concerns with regard to this separation (Allen 1986; Bowler 1989). Others hold that this separation was itself an expression of the embryological interests of early geneticists in their search for “developmental invariants” (Gilbert 1978; Griesemer 2000). Be that as it may, the result was that the relations between the two spaces, once separated by abstraction, were now elucidated experimentally in their own right (Falk 1995). Michel Morange observed that this “division was logically absurd”—from hindsight but—“historically and scientifically necessary” (Morange 2001, 9).

Johannsen himself stressed that the genotype had to be treated as independent of any life history and thus, at least within the bounds of time in which research operated, as an “ahistoric” entity amenable to scientific scrutiny like the objects of physics and chemistry (Johannsen 1911, 139; cf. Churchill 1974; Roll-Hansen 1978a). “The personal qualities of any individual organism do not at all cause the qualities of its offspring; but the qualities of both ancestor and descendant are in quite the same manner determined by the nature of the sexual substances,” Johannsen claimed (Johannsen 1911, 130). Unlike most Mendelians, however, he remained convinced that the genotype would possess an overall architecture—as expressed in the notion of “type”. He therefore had reservations with respect to its particulate nature, and especially warned that the notion of “genes for a particular character” should always be used cautiously if not altogether be omitted (Johannsen 1911, 147). Johannsen also remained consciously agnostic with respect to the material constitution of the genotype and its elements. He clearly recognized that the experimental regime of Mendelian genetics, although scientific in its character like physics or chemistry, did neither require nor allow for any definite supposition about the material structure of the genetic elements. “Personally,” he wrote as late as 1923, “I believe in a great central something as yet not divisible into separate factors,” identifying this “something” with the specific nature of the organism. “The pomace-flies in Morgan's splendid experiments,” he explained, “continue to be pomace-flies even if they loose all good genes necessary for a normal fly-life, or if they be possessed with all the bad genes, detrimental to the welfare of this little friend of the geneticist” (Johannsen 1923, 137).

On this account, genes were taken as abstract elements of an equally abstract space, whose structure, however, could be explored through the visible and quantifiable outcome of breeding experiments based on model organisms and their mutants. This became the research program of Thomas Hunt Morgan and his group. From the early 1910s right into the 1930s, the growing community of researchers around Morgan and their followers used mutants of the fruit fly Drosophila melanogaster, constructed in ever more sophisticated ways, in order to produce a map of the fruit flys genotype in which genes, and alleles thereof, figured as genetic markers occupying a particular locus on one of the four homologous chromosome pairs of the fly (Kohler 1994). The basic assumptions that allowed the program to operate were that genes were located in a linear order along the different chromosomes (like "beads on a string" as Morgan put it in 1926, 24), and that the frequency of recombination events between homologous chromosomes, that is, the frequency of crossovers during reduction division, gave a measure of the distance between the genes, at the same time defining them as units of recombination (Morgan et al. 1915).

In this practice, identifiable aspects of the phenotype, assumed to be determined directly by genes in a consciously black-boxed manner, were used as indicators or windows for an outlook on the formal structure of the genotype. This is what Moss has termed the “Gene-P” (P standing for phenotype, but also for preformationist; Moss 2003, 45 – for the counterpart, the “Gene-D”, see below). Throughout his career, Morgan remained aware of the formal character of his program. As late as 1933, on the occasion of his Nobel address, he declared: “At the level at which the genetic experiments lie it does not make the slightest difference whether the gene is a hypothetical unit, or whether the gene is a material particle” (Morgan 1935, 3). In particular, it did not matter if one-to-one, or more complicated relationships reigned between genes and traits (Waters 1994). Morgan and his school were well aware that, as a rule, many genes were involved in the development of a particular trait as, e.g., eye-color, and that one gene could affect several characters. To accommodate this difficulty and in line with their experimental regime, they embraced a differential concept of the gene. What mattered to them was the relationship between a change in a gene and a change in a trait, rather than the nature of these entities themselves. Thus the alteration of a trait could be causally related to a change in (or a loss of) a single genetic factor, even if it was plausible in general that a trait like eye-color was, in fact, determined by a whole group of variously interacting genes (Roll-Hansen 1978b; Schwartz 2000).

The fascination of this gene concept consisted in the fact that it worked, if properly applied, like a precision instrument in developmental and evolutionary studies. On the one hand, the classical gene allowed for the identification of developmental processes across generations. As a consequence, procedures of classical genetics were soon integrated with the panoply of methods that embryologists had developed since the end of the nineteenth to “track” development. (Griesemer 2007). On the other hand, mathematical population geneticists like Ronald A. Fisher, J. B. S. Haldane, and Sewall Wright could make use of the classical gene with equal rigor and precision to elaborate testable mathematical models describing the effects of evolutionary factors like selection and mutation on the genetic composition of populations (Provine 1971). As a consequence, evolution became re-defined as a change of gene frequencies in the gene pool of a population in what is commonly called the “evolutionary,” “neo-Darwinian” or simply “modern synthesis” of the late 1930s and early 1940s (Mayr & Provine 1980, Gayon 1998). Considered as a “developmental invariant” in reproduction, solely obeying the Mendelian laws in its transmission from one generation to the next, the classical gene provided a kind of inertia principle against which the effects of both developmental (epistasis, inhibition, position effects etc.) and evolutionary factors (selection, mutation, isolation, recombination etc.) could be measured with utmost accuracy (Gayon 1995, 74). We will revisit the evolutionary synthesis in the third section; for the remainder of this section, we would like to turn to the early history of developmental genetics, which played an important role in the eventual “reification” of the gene.

Despite the formal character of the classical gene, it became the conviction of many geneticians in the 1920s, among them Morgans student Herman J. Muller, that genes had to be material particles. Muller saw genes as fundamentally endowed with two properties: that of autocatalysis and that of heterocatalysis. Their autocatalytic function allowed them to reproduce as units of transmission and thus to connect the genotype of one generation to that of the next. Their concomitant capability of reproducing mutations faithfully once they had occurred gave rise, on this account, to the possibility of evolution. Their heterocatalytic capabilities connected them to the phenotype, as units of function involved in the expression of a particular character. With his own experimental work, Muller added a significant argument for the materiality of the gene, pertaining to the third aspect of the gene as a unit of mutation. In 1927, he reported on the induction of Mendelian mutations in Drosophila by using X-rays. He was not the first to use radiation to induce mutations, but stands out for his conclusion that X-rays caused mutations by altering some molecular structure in a permanent fashion, thus giving rise to a whole “industry” of radiation genetics in the 1930s and 1940s.

But the experimental practice of X-raying alone could not open the path to a material characterization of genes as units of heredity. On the occasion of the fiftieth anniversary of the rediscovery of Mendel's work in 1950, Muller thus had to confess: “[T]he real core of gene theory still appears to lie in the deep unknown. That is, we have as yet no actual knowledge of the mechanism underlying that unique property which makes a gene a gene—its ability to cause the synthesis of another structure like itself, [in] which even the mutations of the original gene are copied. [We] do not know of such things yet in chemistry” (Muller 1951, 95-96).

Meanwhile, cytological work had also added credence to the materiality of genes-on-chromosomes. At the same time, however, it further complicated the notion of the classical gene. During the 1930s, the cytogeneticist Theophilus Painter correlated formal patterns of displacement of genetic loci on Morganian chromosome maps with corresponding visible changes in the banding pattern of giant salivary gland chromosomes of Drosophila. Barbara McClintock was able to follow with her microscope the changes—translocations, inversions and deletions—induced by X-rays in the chromosomes of Zea mays (maize). Simultaneously, Alfred Sturtevant, in his experimental work on the Bar-eye-effect in Drosophila at the end of the 1920s, had shown what came to be called a position effect: the expression of a mutation was dependent on the position which the corresponding gene occupied in the chromosome. This finding stirred wide-ranging discussions about what Muller had called the heterocatalytic aspect of a gene, namely, its functional association with the expression of a particular phenotypic trait. If a genes function depended on its position on the chromosome, it became questionable whether that function was stably connected to that gene at all, or as Richard Goldschmidt later assumed, whether physiological function was not altogether a question of the organization of the genetic material as a whole rather than of particulate genes (Goldschmidt 1940; cf. Dietrich 2000 and Richmond 2007).

Thus far, all experimental approaches to the new field of genetics and its presumed elements, the genes, had remained silent with respect to the two basic Mullerian aspects of the gene: its autocatalytic and its heterocatalytic function. Toward the end of the 1930s, Max Delbrück had the intuition that the question of autocatalysis, that is, replication, could be attacked through the study of phage, i.e., viruses replicating in bacteria. It has, however, been noted that the phage system, which he established throughout the 1940s, largely remained as formal as that of classical Drosophila genetics. Seymour Benzer, for example, used this system in an entirely “classical” manner to increase the resolving power of genetic mapping techniques down to distances of a few nucleotide pairs, thus preparing the ground for Francis Cricks sequence hypothesis. Interestingly, Benzer came to the conclusion that “gene” was a “dirty word,” as the inferred molecular dimensions of the gene as a unit of function, recombination, and mutation clearly differed. Consequently, he suggested referring to genetic elements as cistrons, recons and mutons respectively (Holmes 2006).

Around the same time, Alfred Kühn and his group, as well as Boris Ephrussi with George Beadle, were able to open a window on the space between the gene and its presumed physiological function by transplanting organs between mutant and wild type insects. Studying the pigmentation of insect eyes, they realized that genes did not directly give rise to physiological substances, but that they obviously first initiated what Kühn termed a “primary reaction” leading to ferments or enzymes, which in turn catalyzed particular steps in metabolic reaction cascades. In 1941, Kühn summarized the perspective of this kind of “developmental-physiological genetics,” as he called it:

We stand only at the beginning of a vast research domain. [Our] apprehension of the expression of hereditary traits is changing from a more or less static and preformistic conception to a dynamic and epigenetic one. The formal correlation of individual genes mapped to specific loci on the chromosomes with certain characters has only a limited meaning. Every step in the realization of characters is, so to speak, a node in a network of reaction chains from which many gene actions radiate. One trait appears to have a simple correlation to one gene only as long as the other genes of the same action chain and of other action chains that are part of the same node remain the same. Only a methodically conducted genetic, developmental and physiological analysis of a great number of single mutations can gradually disclose the driving action of the hereditary dispositions (das Wirkgetriebe der Erbanlagen) (Kühn 1941, 258).

Kühn viewed his experiments as the beginning of a reorientation away from what he perceived as the new preformationism of transmission genetics (Rheinberger 2000a). He pleaded for an epigenetics that would combine genetic, developmental and physiological analyses to define heterocatalysis, that is, the expression of a gene, as the result of an interaction of two reaction chains, one leading from genes to particular ferments and the other leading from one metabolic intermediate to the next by the intervention of these ferments, thus resulting in complex epigenetic networks. But his own experimental practice throughout the 1940s led him to stay with the completion of the pathway of eye pigment formation in Ephestia kühniella (the flour-moth). He did not try to develop experimental instruments to attack the gene-enzyme relations themselves implicated in the process. On the other side of the Atlantic, George Beadle and Edward Tatum, working with cultures of Neurospora crassa, codified the latter connection into the one gene-one enzyme hypothesis. But to them, too, the material character of genes and the way these putative entities gave rise to primary products remained elusive and beyond the reach of their own biochemical analysis.

Thus by the 1940s, the gene in classical genetics was already far from being a simple notion corresponding to a simple entity. Conceiving of the gene as a unit of transmission, recombination, mutation, and function, classical geneticists combined various aspects of hereditary phenomena whose interrelations, as a rule, turned out not to be simple one-to-one relationships. Due to the lack of knowledge about the material nature of the gene, however, the classical gene remained a largely formal and operational concept, i.e., had to be substantiated indirectly by the successes achieved in explaining and predicting experimental results. This lack notwithstanding, however, the mounting successes of the various research strands associated with classical genetics led to a “hardening” of the belief in the gene as a discrete, material entity (Falk 2000, 323-26).

3. The Gene in Molecular Genetics

The enzyme view of gene function, as envisaged by Kühn and by Beadle and Tatum, though with cautious reservation, gave the idea of genetic specificity a new twist and helped to pave the way to the molecularization of the gene to which this section will be devoted (see also Kay 1993). The same can be said about the findings of Oswald Avery and his colleagues in the early 1940s. They purified the deoxyribonuleic acid of one strain of bacteria, and demonstrated that it was able to transmit the infectious characteristics of that strain to another, harmless one. Yet the historical path that led to an understanding of the nature of the molecular gene was not a direct follow-up of classical genetics (cf. Olby 1974 and Morange 2000a). It was rather embedded in an over-all molecularization of biology driven by the application of newly developed physical and chemical methods and instruments to problems of biology, including those of genetics. Among these methods were ultracentrifugation, X-ray crystallography, electron microscopy, electrophoresis, macromolecular sequencing, and radioactive tracing. At the biological end, it relied on the transition to new, comparatively simple model organisms like unicellular fungi, bacteria, viruses, and phage. A new culture of physically and chemically instructed in vitro biology ensued that in large parts did no longer rest on the presence of intact organisms in a particular experimental system (Rheinberger 1997; Landecker 2007).

For the development of molecular genetics in the narrower sense, three lines of experimental inquiry proved to be crucial. They were not connected to each other when they gained momentum in the late 1940s, but they happened to merge at the beginning of the 1960s, giving rise to a grand new picture. The first of these developments was the elucidation of the structure of deoxyribonucleic acid (DNA) as a macromolecular double helix by Francis Crick and James D. Watson in 1953. This work was based on chemical information about base composition of the molecule provided by Erwin Chargaff, on data from X-ray crystallography produced by Rosalind Franklin and Maurice Wilkins, and on mechanical model building as developed by Linus Pauling. The result was a picture of a nucleic acid double strand whose four bases (Adenine, Thymine, Guanine, Cytosine) formed complementary pairs (A-T, G-C) that could be arranged in all possible combinations into long linear sequences. At the same time, that molecular model suggested an elegant mechanism for the duplication of the molecule. Opening the strands and synthesizing two new strands complementary to each of the separated threads respectively would suffice to create two identical helices from one. This indeed turned out to be the case, although the duplication process would come to be seen as relying on a complicated molecular replication machinery. Thus, the structure of the DNA double helix had all the characteristics that were to be expected from a molecule serving as an autocatalytic hereditary entity (Chadarevian 2002).

The second line of experiment that formed molecular genetics was the in vitro characterization of the process of protein biosynthesis to which many biochemically working researchers contributed, among them Paul Zamecnik, Mahlon Hoagland, Paul Berg, Fritz Lipmann, Marshall Nirenberg and Heinrich Matthaei. It started in the 1940s largely as an effort to understand the growth of malignant tumors. During the 1950s, it became evident that the process required an RNA template that was originally thought to be part of the microsomes on which the assembly of amino acids took place. In addition it turned out that the process of amino acid condensation was mediated by a transfer molecule with the characteristics of a nucleic acid and the capacity to carry an amino acid. The ensuing idea that it was a linear sequence of ribonucleic acid derived from one of the DNA strands that directed the synthesis of a linear sequence of amino acids, or a polypeptide, and that this process was mediated by an adaptor molecule, was soon corroborated experimentally (Rheinberger 1997). The relation between these two classes of molecules was eventually found to be ruled by a nucleic acid triplet code, which consisted in three bases at a time specifying one amino acid (Kay 2000, ch. 6); hence, the sequence hypothesis and the central dogma of molecular biology, which Francis Crick formulated at the end of the 1950s:

In its simplest form [the sequence hypothesis] assumes that the specificity of a piece of nucleic acid is expressed solely by the sequence of its bases, and that this sequence is a (simple) code for the amino acid sequence of a particular protein. [The central dogma] states that once “information” has passed into protein it cannot get out again. In more detail, the transfer of information from nucleic acid to nucleic acid, or from nucleic acid to protein may be possible, but transfer from protein to protein, or from protein to nucleic acid is impossible. Information means here the precise determination of sequence, either of bases in the nucleic acid or of amino acid residues in the protein (Crick 1958, 152-153).

With these two fundamental assumptions, a new view of biological specificity came into play. It was centered on the transfer of molecular order from one macromolecule to the other. In one molecule the order is preserved structurally; in the other it becomes expressed and provides the basis for a biological function. This transfer process became characterized as molecular information transfer. Henceforth, genes could be seen as stretches of deoxyribonucleic acid (or ribonucleic acid in certain viruses) carrying the information for the assembly of a particular protein. Both molecules were thus thought to be colinear, and this indeed turned out to be the case for many bacterial genes. In the end, both fundamental properties that Muller had required of genes, namely autocatalysis and heterocatalysis, were perceived as relying on one and the same stereochemical principle respectively: The base complementarity between nucleic acid building blocks C/G and A/T (U in the case of RNA) was both responsible for the faithful duplication of genetic information in the process of replication, and, via the genetic code, for the transformation of genetic information into biological function through transcription to RNA and translation to proteins.

The code turned out to be nearly universal for all classes of living beings, as were the mechanisms of transcription and translation. The genotype was thus reconfigured as a universal repository of genetic information, sometimes also addressed as a genetic program. Talk of DNA as embodying genetic “information,” as being the “blueprint of life” which governs public discourse until today, emerged from a peculiar conjunction of the physical and the life sciences during World War II, with Erwin Schrödinger's What is Life? as a source of inspiration (Schrödinger 1944), and cybernetics as the then-leading discipline in the study of complex systems. It needs to be stressed, however, that initial attempts to “crack” the DNA code by purely cryptographic means soon ran into a dead end. Finally it was biochemists who unraveled the genetic code by the advanced tools of their discipline (Judson 1996; Kay 2000).

For the further development of the notion of DNA as a “program,” we have to consider an additional third line of experiment, aside from the elucidation of DNA structure and the mechanisms of protein synthesis. This line of experiment came out of a fusion of bacterial genetics with the biochemical characterization of an inducible system of sugar metabolizing enzymes. It was largely the work of François Jacob and Jacques Monod and led, at the beginning of the 1960s, to the identification of messenger RNA as the mediator between genes and proteins, and to the description of a regulatory model of gene activation, the so called operon-model, in which two classes of genes became distinguished: One class was that of structural genes. They were presumed to carry the “structural information” for the production of particular polypeptides. The other class was that of regulatory genes. They were assumed to be involved in the regulation of the expression of structural information (how this distinction became challenged recently is discussed in Piro 2011). A third element of DNA involved in the regulatory loop of an operon was a binding site, or signal sequence that was not transcribed at all.

These three elements, structural genes, regulatory genes, and signal sequences provided the framework for viewing the genotype itself as an ordered, hierarchical system, as a “genetic program,” as Jacob contended, not without immediately adding that it was a very peculiar program, namely one that needed its own products for being executed: “There is only the incessant execution of a program that is inseparable from its realization. For the only elements being able to interpret the genetic message are the products of that message” (Jacob 1976, 297). If we take this view seriously, although the whole conception looks like a circle and has been criticized as such (Keller 2000), it is in the end the organism which interprets or “recruits” the structural genes by activating or inhibiting the regulatory genes that control their expression.

The operon model of Jacob and Monod marked thus the precipitous end of the simple, informational concept of the molecular gene. Since the beginning of the 1960s, the picture of gene expression has become vastly more complicated (for the following, compare Rheinberger 2000b). Moreover, most genomes of higher organisms appear to comprise huge DNA stretches to which no function can as yet be assigned. “Non-coding,” but functionally specific, regulatory DNA-elements have proliferated: There exist promoter and terminator sequences; upstream and downstream activating elements in transcribed or non-transcribed, translated or untranslated regions; leader sequences; externally and internally transcribed spacers before, between, and after structural genes; interspersed repetitive elements and tandemly repeated sequences such as satellites, LINEs (long interspersed sequences) and SINEs (short interspersed sequences) of various classes and sizes. Given all the bewildering details of these elements, it comes as no surprise that their molecular function is still far from being fully understood (for an overview see Fischer 1995).

As far as transcription, i.e., the synthesis of an RNA copy from a sequence of DNA, is concerned, overlapping reading frames have been found on one and the same strand of DNA, and protein coding stretches have been found to derive from both strands of the double helix in an overlapping fashion. On the level of modification after transcription, the picture has become equally complicated. Already in the 1960s it was realized that DNA transcripts such as transfer RNA and ribosomal RNA had to be trimmed and matured in a complex enzymatic manner to become functional molecules, and that messenger RNAs of eukaryotes underwent extensive posttranscriptional modification both at their 5′-ends (capping) and their 3′-ends (polyadenylation) before they were ready to go into the translation machinery. In the 1970s, to the surprise of everybody, Phillip Allen Sharp and Richard J. Roberts independently found that eukaryotic genes were composed of modules, and that, after transcription, introns were cut out and exons spliced together in order to yield a functional message.

The “gene-in-pieces” (Gilbert 1978) was one of the first major scientific offshoots of recombinant DNA technology, and this technology has since continued to be good for unanticipated vistas on the genome and the processing of its units. A spliced messenger sometimes may comprise a fraction as little as ten percent or less of the primary transcript. Since the late 1970s, molecular biologists have become familiar with various kinds of RNA splicing autocatalytic self-splicing, alternative splicing of one single transcript to yield different messages and even trans-splicing of different primary transcripts to yield one hybrid message. In the case of the egg-laying hormone of Aplysia, to take just one example, one and the same stretch of DNA gives rise to eleven protein products involved in the reproductive behavior of this snail. Finally, yet another mechanism, or rather, class of mechanisms has been found to operate on the level of RNA transcripts. It is called messenger RNA editing. In this case-which in the meanwhile has turned out not just to be an exotic curiosity of some trypanosomes-the original transcript is not only cut and pasted, but its nucleotide sequence is systematically altered after transcription. The nucleotide replacement happens before translation starts, and is mediated by various guide RNAs and enzymes that excise old and insert new nucleotides in a variety of ways to yield a product that is no longer complementary to the DNA stretch from which it was originally derived, and a protein that is no longer co-linear with the DNA sequence in the classical molecular biological sense.

The complications with the molecular biological gene continue on the level of translation, i.e., the synthesis of a polypeptide according to the sequence of triplets of the mRNA molecule. There are findings such as translational starts at different start codons on one and the same messenger RNA; instances of obligatory frameshifting within a given message without which a nonfunctional polypeptide would result; and post-translational protein modification such as removing amino acids from the amino terminus of the translated polypeptide. There is another observation called protein splicing, instances of which have been reported since the early 1990s. Here, portions of the original translation product have to be cleaved out (inteins) and others joined together (exteins) before yielding a functional protein. And finally, a recent development from the translational field is that a ribosome can manage to translate two different messenger RNAs into one single polypeptide. François Gros, after a life in molecular biology, has come to the rather paradoxically sounding conclusion that in view of this perplexing complexity, the “exploded gene” le gène éclaté could be specified, if at all, only by “the products that result from its activity,” that is, the functional molecules to which it gives rise (Gros 1991, 297). But it appears difficult, if thought through, to follow Gros' advice of such a reverse definition, as the phenotype would come to define the genotype.

The most recent debates concerning the structure and function of the genome are centered around the Encyclopedia of DNA Elements (ENCODE) project. The project aimed at identifying all functional elements in the human genome. The results of the consortium´s work so far make the already known deviations from the classic model of the molecular gene as a continuous protein coding region flanked by regulatory regions appear as the rule rather than the exception. To a large extent ENCODE researchers found overlap of transcripts, products derived from widely separated pieces of DNA sequence and widely dispersed regulatory sequences for a given gene. The findings also confirm that most of the genome is transcribed and emphasize the importance and pervasiveness of functional non-protein-coding RNA transcripts that has emerged during the last decade suggesting a “vast hidden layer of RNA regulatory transactions” (Mattick 2007). In the light of these findings a definition of the gene has been proposed, according to which “The gene is a union of genomic sequences encoding a coherent set of potentially overlapping functional products.” (Gerstein et al 2007, 677). Such definitions mainly serve the purpose of solving the annotation problem (Baetu 2012), which becomes particularly important in the context of the increasing importance of bioinformatics and the use of databases that requires a consistent ontology (Leonelli 2008). More controversial is the notion of function involved here. According to the ENCODE Consortium their data enabled them “to assign biochemical functions for 80% of the genome.” (ENCODE Project Consortium 2012, 57), despite the fact that according to conservative estimates only 3–8% of bases are under purifying selection, which is usually taken to indicate sequence function. Critics have argued that an etiological notion of function, according to which function is a selected effect, is more appropriate in the context of functional genomics (Doolittle et al. 2014), whereas others maintain that any causal role of a strand of DNA might be relevant, especially in biomedical research (see Germain et al. 2014 for a philosophical take on the discussion). As we have noticed for previous twists and turns in the history of the gene concept, these developments have been driven by technological advances, in particular in deep RNA sequencing and in identifying protein-DNA interactions.

In conclusion, it can be said with Falk (2000, 327) that, on the one hand, the autocatalytic property once attributed to the gene as an elementary unit has been relegated to the DNA at large. Replication can no longer be taken as being specific to the gene as such. After all, the process of DNA replication is not punctuated by the boundaries of coding regions. On the other hand, as many observers of the scene have remarked (Kitcher 1982; Gros 1991; Morange 2001; Portin 1993; Fogle 2000), it has become ever harder to define clear-cut properties of a gene as a functional unit with heterocatalytic properties. It has become a matter of choice under contextual constraints as to which sequence elements are to be included and which ones to be excluded in the functional characterization of a gene. Some have therefore adopted a pluralist attitude towards gene concepts. (Burian 2004).

There have been different reactions to this situation. Scientists like Thomas Fogle and Michel Morange concede that there is no longer a precise definition of what could count as a gene. But they do not worry much about this situation and are ready to continue to talk about genes in a pluralist, contextual, and pragmatic manner (Fogle 1990, 2000; Morange 2000b). Elof Carlson and Petter Portin have as well concluded that the present gene concept is abstract, general, and open, despite or just because present knowledge of the structure and organization of the genetic material has become so comprehensive and so detailed. But they, like Richard Burian (1985), take open concepts with a large reference potential not only as a deficit to live with, but as a potentially productive tool in science. Such concepts offer options and leave choices open (Carlson 1991, Portin 1993). Philosopher Philip Kitcher, as a consequence of all the molecular input concerning the gene, already some 25 years ago praised the “heterogenous reference potential” of the gene as a virtue and drew the ultraliberal conclusion that “there is no molecular biology of the gene. There is only molecular biology of the genetic material” (Kitcher 1982, 357).

From the perspective of the autocatalytic and evolutionary dimension of the genetic material, the reproductive function ascribed to genes has turned out to be a function of the whole genome. The replication process, that is, the transmission aspect of genetics as such has revealed itself to be a complicated molecular process whose versatility, far from being restricted to gene shuffling during meiotic recombination, constitutes a reservoir for evolution and is run by a highly complex molecular machinery including polymerases, gyrases, DNA binding proteins, repair mechanisms, and more. Genomic differences, targeted by selection, then can, but must not become “compartmented into genes” during evolution, as Peter Beurton has put it (Beurton 2000, 303).

On the other hand, there are those who take the heterocatalytic variability of the gene as an argument to treat the genetic material as a whole, hence genes as well, no longer as fundamental in its own right, but rather as a developmental resource that needs to be contextualized. They claim that time has come, if not to dissolve, then at least to embed genetics in development and even development in reproduction—as James Griesemer suggests (Griesemer 2000)—and thus to pick up the thread where Kühn and others left it more than half a century ago. Consequently, Moss defines “Gene-D” (the counterpart of the previously mentioned phenotypically defined Gene-P) as a “developmental resource (hence the D), which in itself is indeterminate with respect to phenotype. To be a Gene-D is to be a transcriptional unit on a chromosome, within which are contained molecular template resources” (Moss 2003, 46; cf. Moss 2008). On this view, these templates constitute only one reservoir on which the developmental process draws and are not ontologically privileged as hereditary molecules.

With molecular biology the classical gene “went molecular” (Waters 1994). Ironically, the initial idea of genes as simple stretches of DNA coding for a protein became dissolved in this process. As soon as the gene of classical genetics had acquired material structure through molecular biology, the biochemical and physiological mechanisms that accounted for its transmission and expression proliferated. The development of molecular biology itself—that enterprise which is so often described as an utterly reductionist conquest—has made it impossible to think of the genome simply as a set of pieces of contiguous DNA co-linear with the proteins derived from it. At the beginning of the twenty-first century, when the results of the Human Genome Project were timely presented on the fiftieth anniversary of the double helix, molecular genetics seems to have accomplished a full circle, readdressing reproduction and inheritance no longer from a purely genetic, but from an evolutionary-developmental perspective. At the same time, the gene has become a central category in medicine in the course of the 20th century (Lindee 2005) and dominates discourses of health and disease in the postgenomic era (Rose 2007).

4. The Gene in Evolution and Development

One of the more spectacular events in the history of twentieth-century biology as a discipline, triggered by the rise of genetics (mathematical population genetics in particular), was the so-called “modern evolutionary synthesis.” In a whole series of textbooks, published by evolutionary biologists like Theodosius Dobzhansky, Ernst Mayr and Julian S. Huxley, the results of population genetics were used to re-establish Darwinian, selectionist evolution. After the “eclipse of Darwinism”, which had reigned around 1900 (Bowler 1983), neo-Darwinism once again provided a unifying, explanatory framework for biology that also included the more descriptive, naturalist disciplines like systematics, biogeography, and paleontology (Provine 1971; Mayr & Provine 1980; Smocoovitis 1996).

Scott Gilbert (2000) has singled out six aspects of the notion of the gene as it had been used in population genetics up to the modern evolutionary synthesis. First, it was an abstraction, an entity that had to fulfill formal requirements, but that did not need to be and indeed was not materially specified. Second, the evolutionary gene had to result in or had to be correlated with some phenotypic difference that could be “seen” or targeted by selection. Third, and by the same token, the gene of the evolutionary synthesis was the entity that was ultimately responsible for selection to occur and last across generations. Fourth, the gene of the evolutionary synthesis was largely equated with what molecular biologists came to call “structural genes.” Fifth, it was a gene expressed in an organism competing for reproductive advantage. And finally, it was seen as a largely independent unit. Richard Dawkins has taken this last argument to its extreme by defining the gene as a “selfish” replicator with a life of its own, competing with its fellow genes and using the organism as an instrument for its own survival (Dawkins 1976; cf. Sterelny and Kitcher 1988).

Molecular biology, with higher organisms moving center-stage during the past three decades, has made a caricature of this kind of evolutionary gene, and has moved before our eyes genes and whole genomes as complex systems not only allowing for evolution to occur, but being themselves subjected to a vigorous process of evolution. The genome in its entirety has taken on a more and more flexible and dynamic configuration. Evelyn Fox Keller speaks of “reactive genomes” (Keller 2014). Not only have the mobile genetic elements, characterized by McClintock more than half a century ago in Zea mays, gained currency in the form of transposons that regularly and irregularly can become excised and inserted all over bacterial and eukaryotic genomes, there are also other forms of shuffling that occur at the DNA level. A gigantic amount of somatic gene tinkering and DNA splicing, for instance, is involved in organizing the immune response. It gives rise to the production of potentially millions of different antibodies. No genome would be large enough to cope with such a task if not the parceling out of genes and a sophisticated permutation of their parts had not been invented during evolution. Gene families have arisen from duplication over time, containing silenced genes (sometimes called pseudogenes). Genes themselves appear to have largely arisen from modules by combination. We find jumping genes and multiple genes of one sort coding for different protein isoforms. In short, there appears to be a whole battery of mechanisms and entities that constitute what has been called “hereditary respiration” (Gros 1991, 337).

Molecular evolutionary biologists have scarcely scratched the surface and barely started to understand this flexible genetic apparatus, although Jacob already put forward a view of the genome as a dynamic body of ancestrally iterated and tinkered pieces more than thirty years ago (Jacob 1977). Genome sequencing combined with intelligent sequence data comparison is currently bringing out more and more of this structure (on the history of these developments, see García-Sancho 2012, on data-driven biology, see Stevens 2013). One of the surprising results of the Human Genome Project has been that there are only 21,000 genes. If there is a chance to understand evolution beyond the classical, itself largely formal, evolutionary synthesis, it is from such perspectives of learning more about the genome as a dynamic and modular configuration. The purported elementary events on the basis of which the complex machinery of genome expression and reproduction operates—such as point mutations, nucleotide deletions, additions, and oligonucleotide inversions—are no longer the only elements of the evolutionary process, but solely one component in a much wider arsenal of DNA-tinkering. Beurton concludes from all this that the gene is no longer to be seen as the unit of evolution, but rather as its late product, the eventual result of a long history of genomic condensation (Beurton 2000). Others have argued that genomic analysis is not concerned with learning about genes as functionally or structurally defined units, but with “identifying causal relationships between parts of genomes and molecular products and identifying different” (Perini 2011).

Finally, recent years have seen a steady increase in evidence for epigenetic inheritance systems (Jablonka and Raz 2009, see also the entry on inheritance systems). This development has not only been promoted as a revolution in molecular biology, defining the post-genomic era (see Meloni and Testa 2014 for a discussion of the sociology of hype and expectation in this respect), but has led to yet another change in the concept of the gene, in so far as it can no longer be seen as the only unit of inheritance and selection and the primary cause in development. While “epigenetics” refers more generally to processes of cell determination and differentiation — so called “epigenetic control systems,” — epigenetic inheritance “occurs when phenotypic variations that do not stem from variations in DNA base sequences are transmitted to subsequent generations of cells or organisms” (Jablonka and Raz 2009, 132). While this can include developmental interactions between mother and offspring, social learning, symbolic communication, there is also a more narrow concept of cellular epigenetic inheritance. It refers to “the transmission from mother cell to daughter cell of variations that are not the result of differences in DNA base sequence and/or the present environment” (Jablonka and Raz 2009, 132). Cellular epigenetic inheritance systems discussed in the literature are the transmission of chromatin marks, especially DNA methylation, and RNAs, the inheritance of protein conformations, such as in prions, and self-sustaining loops and chromatin inheritance in bacteria. In multicellular organisms, especially the first type of mechanisms can explain how differentiated cells give rise to identical daughter cells even if the signal that initiated differentiation is gone.

But more important for the concept of heredity is cellular transgenerational epigenetic inheritance. In such cases “the environment may induce epigenetic variation by directly affecting the germline or by affecting germ cells through the mediation of the soma, but, in either case, subsequent transmission is through the germline” (Jablonka and Raz 2009, 133). This clearly implies that “the epigenetic body brings the Weismannian body to an end,” as Meloni and Testa (2014, 19) put it. Epigenetic variation can have phenotypic effects in the generation exposed to the stimulus, or in its offspring, which can persist for several generations. This possibility opened a new field of interaction between biology and the social sciences, because factors in the human environment, from exposure to toxic compounds, via nutrition to education, can have epigenetic effects that span several generations. The idiom of epigenetics serves to biologize once more social and ethnic difference, and redefines individual vulnerability as well as responsibility and transgenerational accountability concerning effects of lifestyles on health and disease (Meloni and Testa 2014).

Furthermore, epigenetic inheritance in its broad as well as in its narrow meaning has significant consequences for the understanding of evolution and development (Jablonka & Lamb 2005). On the one hand, when combined with the idea of genetic assimilation (Waddington 1957), according to which genes are selected to fixate previous adaptive, but non-genetic variation, epiegenetic inheritance helps to explain how adaptive phenotypic responses become genetically fixed, suggesting neo-Lamarckian views of evolution (West-Eberhard 2003). On the other hand, the investigation of epigenetic mechanisms casts doubt on the causal or informational primacy of genes, or DNA. As a consequence genetic elements are treated on a par with other developmental resources necessary for the formation of a phenotypic trait. From this perspective, “genes” appear as processes resulting in phenotypic outcomes that involve a great number of other resources alongside DNA (Griffiths and Neumann-Held 1999). This view is defended in accounts of Developmental Systems Theory (Oyama et al. 2001; Neumann-Held and Rehmann-Sutter 2006), although this theory has come under attack from philosophers for offering nothing “that aspiring researchers can put to work” (Kitcher 2001, 408; cf. Hall 2001). And, as Meloni and Testa have pointed out, while epigenetics counters gene-centered reductionism, it leads to a reduction of environmental influences to molecular agents. When scientists today speak of the exposome, the suffix ‐ome is indeed supposed to reflect the “digitization of all forms of environmental exposure, from motherly love to toxins, from food to class inequalities, into a single unifying category and syntax” (Meloni and Testa 2014, 18).

We have come a long way with molecular biology from genes to genomes to developmental systems. But there is still a longer way to go from genomes to organisms. The developmental gene as it acquired contours over the last twenty years from the early work of Ed Lewis and Antonio Garcia-Bellido, and from later work by Walter Gehring, Christiane Nüsslein-Volhard, Eric Wieschaus, Peter Gruss, Denis Duboule, and others, allows us possibly to go a step along on this way. As Gilbert (2000) argues, it is the exact counterpart to the gene of the evolutionary synthesis. But we need to be more specific and direct attention to what have been termed “developmental genes” proper. As it turned out, largely from an exhaustive exploitation of mutation saturation and genetic engineering technologies, fundamental processes in development such as segmentation or eye formation in such widely different organisms as insects and mammals are decisively influenced by the activation and inhibition of a class of regulatory genes that to some extent resemble the regulator genes of the operon model. But in distinction to these long-known regulatory genes, whose function rests on their ability to being reversibly switched on and off according to the requirements of actual metabolic and environmental situations, developmental genes initiate irreversible processes. They code for so-called transcription factors which can bind to control regions of DNA and thus influence the rate of transcription of a particular gene or a whole set of genes at a particular stage of development. Among them are what may be called developmental genes of a second order which appear to control and modulate the units gated by developmental genes of the first order. They act as a veritable kind of “master switch” and have been found to be highly conserved throughout evolution. An example is a member of the pax-gene family that can switch on a whole complex process such as eye formation from insects to vertebrates. Most surprisingly, the homologous gene isolated from the mouse can replace the one present in Drosophila, and when placed in the fruit fly, switch on, not mammalian eye formation, but insect eye formation. Many of these genes or gene families, like the homeobox-family, are thought to be involved in the generation of spatial patterning during embryogenesis as well as in its temporal patterning.

Morange (2000b) distinguishes two central “hard facts” that can be retained from this actually highly fluid and contested research field. The first is that the regulatory genes appear to play a central role in development as judged from the often drastic effects resulting from their inactivation. And second, it appears that not only particular homeotic genes have been highly conserved between distantly related organisms, but that they tend to come in complexes which have themselves been structurally conserved throughout evolution, thus once more testifying to genomic higher order-structures. Another class of such highly conserved genes and gene complexes is involved in the formation of components of pathways that bring about intracellular and cell-to-cell signaling. These processes are of obvious importance for cellular differentiation and for embryonic development of multi-cellular organisms.

One of the big surprises of the extensive use of the technology of targeted gene knockout has been that genes thought to be indispensable for a particular function, when knocked out, did not alter or at least did not significantly alter the organisms performance. This made developmental molecular biologists aware that the networks of development appear to be largely redundant, and that certain parts can compensate for eventually missing parts (Mitchell 2009, Ch. 4). These networks are obviously highly buffered and thus robust to a considerable extent with respect to changing external and internal conditions. Gene products are of course involved in these networks and their complex functions, but these functions are by no means defined by the genes alone. Another result, coming from embryonic gene expression studies with recently developed chip technologies, was that one and the same gene product can be expressed at different stages of development and in different tissues, and that it can be implicated in quite different metabolic and cellular functions. Again, this multi-functionality of genes may help to rethink what genetic and biological determination means (see also the discussion of biological determinism in the entry on feminist philosophy of biology).

These recent results seriously call into question the further applicability of straightforward “gene-for” talk. The discovery of developmental genes throws light on the way in which the genome as a whole is organized as a dynamic, modular, and robust entity. Unlike the pieces of DNA with a determinate function as originally envisioned by molecular genetics, developmental genes appear as highly conserved in evolution, yet highly variable and redundant in function. They rather look like molecular building blocks with which evolution tinkers in constructing organisms—or with which organisms tinker in evolving. In recent years, evolutionary theories have come to acknowledge this active role of the organism in making use of, and even shaping highly conserved genetic mechanisms (West-Eberhard 2003; Kirschner & Gerhart 2005).

5. The Question of Reduction

As we argued in the preceding sections, the history of twentieth-century genetics is characterized by a proliferation of methods for the individuation of genetic components, and, accordingly, by a proliferation of gene definitions. These definitions appear to be largely technology-dependent. Major conceptual changes did not precede but followed experimental breakthroughs. Especially the contrast of the “classical” and the “molecular” gene, the latter succeeding the former chronologically, has raised issues of how such alternative concepts relate semantically, ontologically, and epistemologically. Understanding these relations might offer a chance to convey some order to the bewildering variety of meanings inscribed in the concept of the gene in the course of a long century.

In a now classical paper, Kenneth Schaffner argued that molecular biology—the Watson-Crick model of DNA in particular—effected a reduction of the laws of (classical) genetics to physical and chemical laws (Schaffner 1969, 342). The successes of molecular biology in identifying DNA as the genetic material—as Watson's and Crick's discovery of the DNA structure or the Meselson-Stahl experiment—lend empirical support, according to Schaffner, “for reduction functions involved in the reduction of biology as: gene1 = DNA sequence1.” Schaffner's account was severely criticized by David Hull, who pointed out that relations between Mendelian and molecular terms are “many-many, and ” not “one-one” or “many-one” relations as assumed by Schaffner, because “phenomena characterized by a single Mendelian predicate term can be reproduced by several types of molecular mechanisms [... and] conversely, the same type of molecular mechanism can produce phenomena that must be characterized by different Mendelian predicate terms” (Hull 1974, 39). “To convert these many-many relations,” Hull concluded, “into the necessary one-one or many-one relations leading from molecular to Mendelian terms, Mendelian genetics must be modified extensively. Two problems then arise —the justification for terming these modifications ‘corrections’ and the transition from Mendelian to molecular genetics ‘reduction’ rather than ‘replacement’” (Hull 1974, 43).

To account for this difficulty and accommodate the intuition (which Hull shared) that there should be at least some way in which it makes sense to speak of a reduction of classical to molecular genetics, Alexander Rosenberg adopted the notion of supervenience (coined by Donald Davidson and going back to George Edward Moore) to describe the relation of classical to molecular genetics. Supervenience implies that any two items that share the same properties in molecular terms, also have the same properties in Mendelian terms, without, however, entailing a commitment that Mendelian laws must be deducible from the laws of biochemistry (Rosenberg 1978). This recalls the way in which classical geneticists related gene differences and trait differences in the differential gene concept, where trait differences were used as markers for genetic differences without implying a deducibility of trait behavior, the dominance or recessivity of traits in particular, from Mendelian laws (Schwartz 2000; Falk 2001). Interestingly, Kenneth Waters has argued on this basis, and against Hull, that the complexity that was revealed by molecular genetics was simply the complexity already posited, albeit in an abstract manner, by classical geneticists (Waters 1994, 2000). While relations between molecular and classical genetics have proven to be non-deductive, they exist and connect the two fields in epistemically productive ways on a case-by-case basis (Kitcher 1984; Schaffner 1993; Darden 2005; Weber 2007).

The literature on genetics and reductionism has meanwhile become as variegated and complex as the field of scientific activities it attends to illuminate. In his book-length, critical assessment of that literature, Sahotra Sarkar made an interesting move by distinguishing five different concepts of reduction, of which he considers three to be particularly relevant to genetics: “weak reduction,” exemplified by the notion of heritability; “abstract hierarchical reduction,” exemplified by classical genetics; and “approximate strong reduction,” exemplified by the use of “information”-based explanation in molecular genetics. The perhaps not so surprising result with which Sarkar comes up is that “reduction—in its various types—is scientifically interesting beyond, especially, the formal concerns of most philosophers of sciences” in that it constitutes a “valuable, sometimes exciting, and occasionally indispensable strategy in science” and thus needs to be acknowledged as being ultimately “related to the actual practice of genetics” (Sarkar 1998, 190). In a similar vein, Jean Gayon has expounded a “philosophical scheme” for the history of genetics which treats phenomenalism, instrumentalism, and realism not as alternative systems that philosophers have to decide between, but as actual, historically consecutive strategies employed by geneticists in their work (Gayon 2000).

We would finally like to address briefly two issues that are related to the problem of reduction and have occasioned repeated discussion in the philosophical literature. The first point concerns the notion of “information” in molecular genetics. The inflationary early molecular use of the terms “genetic information” and “genetic program” has been widely criticized by philosophers and historians of science alike (Sarkar 1996, Kay 2000, Keller 2001). No one less than Gunther Stent, one of the strongest proponents of what has been termed the “informational school” of molecular biology, warned long ago that talk about “genetic information” is best confined to its explicit and explicable meaning of sequence specification, that is, that it is best to keep it in the local confines of “coding” instead of scaling it up to a global talk of genetic “programming.” “It goes without saying, ” he contends, “that the principles of chemical catalysis [of an enzyme] are not represented in the DNA nucleotide base sequences,” and he concludes:

After all, there is no aspect of the phenome to whose determination the genes cannot be said to have made their contribution. Thus it transpires that the concept of genetic information, which in the heyday of molecular biology was of such great heuristic value for unraveling the structure and function of the genes, i.e., the explicit meaning of that information, is no longer so useful in this later period when the epigenetic relations which remain in want of explanation represent mainly the implicit meaning of that information (Stent 1977, 137).

However, it appears to us that one should remain aware of the fact that the molecular biological notion of a flow of information, in the double sense of storage as well as expression in the interaction between two classes of macromolecules, has added a dimension of talking about living systems that helps to distinguish them specifically from chemical and physical systems characterized solely by flows of matter and flows of energy (Crick 1958; Maynard Smith 2000). Molecular biology, seen by many historians and philosophers of biology as a paragon of reductionism, did not only introduce physics and chemistry into biology, or even reduce the latter to the former. Paradoxically, the achievements of molecular biology also helped to find a new way of conceiving of organisms in a fundamentally non-reductive manner. In a broader vision, this implies “epigenetic” mechanisms of intracellular and intercellular molecular signaling and communication in which genetic information and its differential expression is embedded and through which it is contextualized. Upon this view, it appears not only legitimate, but heuristically productive to conceive of the functional networks of living beings in a biosemiotic terminology instead of a simply mechanistic or energetic idiom (Emmeche 1999).

The second point concerns the already mentioned “gene-for” talk. Why has talk about genes coding for this and that become so entrenched? Why do genes still appear as the ultimate determinants and executers of life? As we have seen in the preceding two sections, the advances in conceptualizing processes of organismic development and evolution have thoroughly deconstructed the view of genes that dominated classical genetics and the early phases of molecular genetics. Why is it, to talk with Moss, that genetics is still “understood not as a practice of instrumental reductionism but rather in the constitutive reductionist vein” implying the “ability to account for the production of the phenotype on the basis of the genes” (Moss 2003, 50)? A recent empirical study by Paul Griffiths and Karola Stotz on how biologists conceptualize genes comes indeed to the conclusion “that the classical molecular gene concept continues to function as something like a stereotype for biologists, despite the many cases in which that conception does not give a principled answer to the question of whether a particular sequence is a gene” (Stotz, Griffiths and Knight 2004, 671). Waters provides a surprising but altogether plausible epistemological answer to this apparent conundrum. He reminds us forcefully that in the context of scientific work and research, genes are first and foremost handled as entities of investigative rather than explanatory value (Waters 2004; cf. Weber 2004, 223). It is on the grounds of their epistemic function in research that they appear so privileged. Waters deliberately goes beyond the question of reductionism or anti-reductionism that has structured so much philosophical work on modern biology, especially on genetics and molecular biology over the past decades, and ties it into the philosophical literature on the relationship between causation and manipulability that has more recently gained in prominence (Waters 2007). He stresses that the successes of a gene-centered view on the organism are not due to the fact that genes are the major determinants of the main processes in living beings. Rather, they figure so prominently because they provide highly successful entry points for the investigation of these processes. The success of gene-centrism, according to this view, is not ontologically, but first and foremost epistemologically and pragmatically grounded (cf. Gannett 1999).

From this, two major philosophical claims result: First, that it is the structure of investigation rather than an all-encompassing system of explanation that has grounded the scientific success of genetics; and second, that the essential incompleteness of genetic explanations, whenever they are meant to be located at the ontological level, calls for the promotion of a scientific pluralism (Waters 2004b; Dupré 2004; Burian 2004; Griffiths and Stotz 2006). The message is that complex objects of investigation such as organisms cannot be successfully understood by a single best account or description, and that any experimentally proceeding science is basically advancing through the construction of successful, but always partial models. Whether and how long these models will continue to be gene-based, remains an open question. Any answers to that question will be contingent on future research results, not on an ontology of life.


  • Allen, Garland, 1986. “T. H. Morgan and the split between embryology and genetics, 1910-1926,” in T. Horder, I. A. Witkowski, and C. C. Wylie (eds.), A History of Embryology, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
  • –––, 2002. “The classical gene: its nature and its legacy,” in L. S. Parker and R. A. Ankeny (eds.), Mutating concepts, evolving disciplines: genetics, medicine and society, Dordrecht: Kluwer Academic Publishers.
  • Baetu, T.M., 2012. “Genes after the human genome project,” Studies in History and Philosophy of Science Part C: Studies in History and Philosophy of Biological and Biomedical Sciences, 43: 191–201.
  • Bateson, William, 1902. Mendel's Principles of Heredity: A Defence, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
  • Beurton, Peter, 2000. “A unified view of the gene, or how to overcome reductionism,” in Peter Beurton, Raphael Falk, and Hans-Jörg Rheinberger (eds.), The Concept of the Gene in Development and Evolution. Historical and Epistemological Perspectives, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 286–314.
  • Bowler, Peter, 1983. The Eclipse of Darwinism, Baltimore: Johns Hopkins University Press.
  • –––, 1989. “The Mendelian Revolution: The Emergence of Hereditarian Concepts in Modern Science and Society,” Baltimore: Johns Hopkins University Press.
  • Burian, Richard M., 1985. “On conceptual change in biology: The case of the gene,” in David J. Depew and Bruce H. Weber (eds.), Evolution at a Crossroads. The New Biology and the New Philosophy of Science, Cambridge, MA: MIT Press, 21–42.
  • –––, 2004. “Molecular Epigenesis, Molecular Pleiotropy, and Molecular Gene Definitions.” History and Philosophy of the Life Sciences, 26: 59–80.
  • Carlson, Elof A., 1966. The Gene: A Critical History, Philadelphia: Saunders.
  • –––, 1991. “Defining the Gene: An Evolving Concept.” American Journal for Human Genetics, 49: 475–487.
  • Chadarevian, Soraya de, 2002. Designs for Life: Molecular Biology after World War II, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
  • Churchill, Frederic, 1974. “William Johannsen and the genotype concept,” Journal of the History of Biology, 7: 5–30.
  • –––, 1987. “From heredity theory to ‘Vererbung’: The transmission problem, 1850-1915,” Isis, 78: 337–364.
  • Coleman, William, 1965. “Cell, nucleus and inheritance: an historical study,” Proceedings of the American Philosophical Society, 109: 124–158.
  • Correns, Carl, 1924. “Die Ergebnisse der neuesten Bastardforschungen für die Vererbungslehre (1901),” in Carl Correns, Gesammelte Abhandlungen zur Vererbungswissenschaft aus periodischen Schriften 1899–1924, Berlin: Julius Springer, 264–286.
  • Crick, Francis, 1958. “On protein synthesis,” Symposium of the Society of Experimental Biology, 12: 138–163.
  • Darden, Lindley, 2005. “Relations among fields: Mendelian, cytological and molecular mechanisms,” Studies in History and Philosophy of the Biological and Biomedical Sciences, 36: 349–371.
  • Dawkins, Richard, 1976. The Selfish Gene, Oxford: Oxford University Press.
  • Dietrich, Michael R., 2000. “From gene to genetic hierarchy: Richard Goldschmidt and the problem of the gene,” in Peter Beurton, Raphael Falk, and Hans-Jörg Rheinberger (eds.), The Concept of the Gene in Development and Evolution. Historical and Epistemological Perspectives, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 91–114.
  • Dobzhansky, Theodosius, 1937. Genetics and the Origin of Species, New York: Columbia University Press.
  • Doolittle, W.F., T.D.P Brunet, S. Linquist, and T.R. Gregory, 2014. “Distinguishing between “Function” and “Effect” in Genome Biology,” Genome Biology and Evolution, 6: 1234–1237.
  • Dunn, Leslie Clarence, 1965. A Short History of Genetics. The Development of some of the Main Lines of Thought: 1864–1939, New York: McGraw-Hill.
  • Dupré, John, 2004. “Understanding contemporary genetics,” Perspectives on Science, 12: 320–338.
  • Elkana, Yehuda, 1970. “Helmholtz Kraft: A case study of ‘concepts in flux’,” Historical Studies in the Physical Sciences, 2: 263–298.
  • Emmeche, Claus, 1999. “The Sarkar challenge: Is there any information in a cell?” Semiotica, 127: 273–293.
  • ENCODE Project Consortium, 2012. “An integrated encyclopedia of DNA elements in the human genome,” Nature, 489: 57–74.
  • Falk, Raphael, 1986. “What is a gene?” Studies in the History and Philsophy of Science, 17: 133-173.
  • –––, 1995. “The struggle of genetics for independence,” Journal of the History of Biology, 28: 219–246.
  • –––, 2000. “The gene–a concept in tension,” in Peter Beurton, Raphael Falk, and Hans-Jörg Rheinberger (eds.), The Concept of the Gene in Development and Evolution. Historical and Epistemological Perspectives, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 317–348.
  • –––, 2001. “The rise and fall of dominance,” Biology and Philosophy, 16: 285–323.
  • Fischer, Ernst Peter, 1995. “How many genes has a human being? The analytical limits of a complex concept,” in E. P. Fischer and Sigmar Klose (eds.), The Human Genome, München: Piper, 223–256.
  • Fogle, Thomas, 1990. “Are genes units of inheritance,” Biology & Philosophy, 5: 349–371.
  • –––, 2000. “The dissolution of protein coding genes in molecular biology,” in Peter Beurton, Raphael Falk, and Hans-Jörg Rheinberger, The Concept of the Gene in Development and Evolution. Historical and Epistemological Perspectives, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 3–25.
  • Gannett, Lisa, 1999. “What's in a cause? The pragmatic dimensions of genetic explanations,” Biology and Philosophy, 14: 349–374.
  • García-Sancho, M., 2012. Biology, Computing, and the History of Molecular Sequencing: From Proteins to DNA, 1945-2000, London: Palgrave Macmillan.
  • Gayon, Jean, 1995. “Entre force et structure: genèse du concept naturaliste de l'hérédité,” in Jean Gayon and Jean-Jacques Wunenburger (eds.), Le paradigme de la filiation, Paris: L'Harmattan.
  • –––, 1998. Darwinism's Struggle for Survival. Heredity and the Hypothesis of Natural Selection, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
  • –––, 2000. “From measurement to organization: A philosophical scheme for the history of the concept of heredity,” in Peter Beurton, Raphael Falk, and Hans-Jörg Rheinberger (eds.), The Concept of the Gene in Development and Evolution. Historical and Epistemological Perspectives, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 69–90.
  • Gayon, Jean and Doris Zallen, 1998. “The role of the Vilmorin Company in the promotion and diffusion of the experimental science of heredity in France, 1840-1920,” Journal of the History of Biology, 31: 241–262.
  • Germain, P.-L., E. Ratti, and F. Boem, 2014. “Junk or functional DNA? ENCODE and the function controversy,” Biology and Philosophy, 29: 807–831.
  • Gerstein, Mark B. et al, 2007. “What is a gene, post-ENCODE? History and updated definition,” Genome Research, 17: 669–681.
  • Gilbert, Scott, 2000. “Genes classical and genes developmental. The different use of genes in evolutionary syntheses,” in Peter Beurton, Raphael Falk, and Hans-Jörg Rheinberger (eds.), The Concept of the Gene in Development and Evolution. Historical and Epistemological Perspectives, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 178–192.
  • Gilbert, W., 1978. “Why genes in pieces?” Nature, 271: 501.
  • Goldschmidt, Richard. 1940. The Material Basis of Evolution, New Haven: Yale University Press.
  • Griesemer, James, 2000. “Reproduction and the reduction of genetics,” in Peter Beurton, Raphael Falk, and Hans-Jörg Rheinberger (eds.), The Concept of the Gene in Development and Evolution. Historical and Epistemological Perspectives, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 240–285.
  • –––, 2007. “Tracking organic processes: Representations and research styles in classical embryology and genetics,” in Manfred D. Laubichler und Jane Maienschein (eds.), From Embryology to Evo-Devo: A History of Developmental Biology, Cambridge, MA: The MIT Press, 375–434.
  • Griffiths, P., and K. Stotz, 2013. Genetics and Philosophy: An Introduction, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
  • Griffiths, Paul, and Karola Stotz. 2006. “Genes in the postgenomic era,” Theoretical Medicine and Bioethics, 27: 499–521.
  • Gros, François, 1991. Les secrets du gène. Nouvelle édition revue et augmeentée, Paris: Editions Odile Jacob.
  • Hall, Brian K., 2001. “The gene is not dead, merely orphaned and seeking a home,” Evolution and Development, 3: 225–228.
  • Holmes, Frederic L., 2006. Reconceiving the Gene: Seymour Benzer's Adventures in Phage Genetics, Edited by William C. Summers. New Haven: Yale University Press.
  • Jablonka, Eva and Marion J. Lamb, 2005. Evolution in Four Dimensions: Genetic, Epigenetic, Behavioral, and Symbolic Variation in the History of Life, Cambridge, MA: The MIT Press.
  • Jablonka, E., and G. Raz, 2009. “Transgenerational epigenetic inheritance: prevalence, mechanisms, and implications for the study of heredity and evolution,” The Quarterly Review of Biology, 84: 131–176.
  • Jacob, François, 1976. The Logic of Life, New York: Vanguard.
  • –––, 1977. “Evolution and tinkering,” Science, 196: 1161–1166.
  • Johannsen Wilhelm, 1911. “The genotype conception of heredity,” The American Naturalist, 45: 129–159.
  • –––, 1909. Elemente der exakten Erblichkeitslehre, Jena: Gustav Fischer.
  • Judson, Horace F., 1996. The Eighth Day of Creation: Makers of the Revolution in Biology, Second edition, Plainview, NY: Cold Spring Harbor Laboratory Press.
  • Kühn, Alfred, 1941. “Über eine Gen-Wirkkette der Pigmentbildung bei Insekten,” Nachrichten der Akademie der Wissenschaften in Göttingen, Mathematisch-Physikalische Klasse, 231–261.
  • Kay, L.E., 1993. The Molecular Vision of Life: Caltech, the Rockefeller Foundation, and the Rise of the New Biology, Oxford: Oxford University Press.
  • Kay, Lily, 2000. Who Wrote the Book of Life? A History of the Genetic Code, Stanford: Stanford University Press.
  • Keller, Evelyn Fox, 2014. “From gene action to reactive genomes,” The Journal of Physiology, 592: 2423–2429.
  • –––, 2000. “Decoding the genetic program: Or, some circular logic in the logic of circularity,” in Peter Beurton, Raphael Falk, and Hans-Jörg Rheinberger (eds.), The Concept of the Gene in Development and Evolution. Historical and Epistemological Perspectives, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 159–177.
  • –––, 2001. The Century of the Gene, Cambridge, MA: Harvard University Press.
  • Kim, Kyung-Man, 1994. Explaining Scientific Consensus: The Case of Mendelian Genetics, New York: Guilford Press.
  • Kirschner, Marc W., and John C. Gerhart, 2005. The Plausibility of Life: Resolving Darwin's Dilemma, New Haven: Yale University Press.
  • Kitcher, Philip, 1982. “Genes,” British Journal for the Philosophy of Science, 33: 337-359.
  • –––, 1984. “1953 and all that: A tale of two sciences,” The Philosophical Review, 93: 335–373.
  • –––, 2001. “Battling the undead: How (and how not) to resist genetic determinism,” in Rama Shankar Singh et al, (eds.), Thinking about Evolution: Historical, Philosophical, and Political Perspectives, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
  • Kohler, Robert E., 1994. Lords of the Fly: Drosophila Genetics and the Experimental Life, Chicago: University of Chicago Press.
  • López Beltrán, Carlos, 2004. “In the cradle of heredity: French physicians and l'hérédité naturelle in the early nineteenth century,” Journal of the History of Biology, 37: 39–72.
  • Landecker, Hannah, 2007. Culturing Life: How Cells Became Technologies, Cambridge, MA: Harvard University Press.
  • Leonelli, S., 2008. “Bio-Ontologies as Tools for Integration in Biology,” Biological Theory, 3: 7–11.
  • Lindee, M.S., 2005. Moments of Truth in Genetic Medicine, Baltimore, Md.: Johns Hopkins University Press.
  • MacKenzie, Donald and Barry Barnes, 1979. “Scientific judgment: The Biometry-Mendelism controversy,” in Barry Barnes and Stephen Shapin (eds.), Natural Order: Historical Studies of Scientific Culture, Beverly Hills: Sage.
  • Martins, Lilian Al-Chueyer Pereira, 1999. “Did Sutton and Boveri propose the so-called Sutton-Boveri chromosome hypothesis?” Genetics and Molecular Biology, 22: 261–271.
  • Mattick, J.S., 2007, “A new paradigm for developmental biology,” Journal of Experimental Biology, 210: 1526–1547.
  • Maynard Smith, John, 2000. “The concept of information in biology,” Philosophy of Science, 67: 177–194.
  • Mayr, Ernst and William Provine (eds.), 1980. The Evolutionary Synthesis: Perspectives on the Unification of Biology, Cambridge, MA: Harvard University Press.
  • Meloni, M., and G. Testa, 2014. “Scrutinizing the epigenetics revolution,” BioSocieties, advance online publication 4 August 2014: 1-26.
  • Mitchell, S.D., 2009. Unsimple Truths: Science, Complexity, and Policy, Chicago: University of Chicago Press.
  • Morange, M., 2000a. A History of Molecular Biology, Cambridge, Mass.: Harvard University Press.
  • –––, 2000b. “The developmental gene concept: History and limits,” in Peter Beurton, Raphael Falk, and Hans-Jörg Rheinberger (eds.), The Concept of the Gene in Development and Evolution. Historical and Epistemological Perspectives, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 193–215.
  • –––, 2001. The Misunderstood Gene, Cambridge, Mass.: Harvard University Press.
  • Morgan, T.H., 1926. The theory of the gene, New Haven: Yale University Press.
  • –––, 1935. “The relation of genetics to physiology and medicine,” Les prix Nobel en 1933, Stockholm: Imprimerie Royale, 1–16.
  • Morgan, Thomas H., Alfred H. Sturtevant, Herman J. Muller, and Calvin B. Bridges, 1915. The Mechanism of Mendelian Heredity, New York: Henry Holt.
  • Moss, Lenny, 2003. What Genes Can't Do, Cambridge: The MIT Press.
  • –––, 2008. “The meanings of the gene and the future of the phenotype,” Genetics, Society and Policy, 4: 38–57.
  • Muller, Herman J., 1951. “The development of the gene theory,” in Leslie C. Dunn (ed.), Genetics in the 20th Century. Essays on the Progress of Genetics During its First 50 Years, New York: Macmillan, 77–99.
  • Müller-Wille, Staffan, 2007. “Hybrids, pure cultures, and pure lines: From nineteenth-century biology to twentieth-century genetics,” Studies in History and Philosophy of the Biological and Biomedical Sciences, 38: 796–806.
  • Müller-Wille, Staffan, and Hans-Jörg Rheinberger, 2007. “Heredity: The Production of an Epistemic Space,” in Staffan Müller-Wille and Hans-Jörg Rheinberger (eds.), Heredity Produced. At the Crossroads of Biology, Politics and Culture, 1500-1870, Cambridge, MA: MIT Press, 3–34.
  • –––, 2012. A Cultural History of Heredity, Chicago: University of Chicago Press.
  • Müller-Wille, Staffan, and Vitezslav Orel, 2007. “From Linnaean species to Mendelian factors: Elements of hybridism, 1751-1870,” Annals of Science, 64: 171–215.
  • Neumann-Held, Eva M., and Christoph Rehmann-Sutter (eds.), 2006. Genes in Development: Re-Reading the Molecular Paradigm, Durham: Duke University Press.
  • Olby, Robert C., 1974. The path to the double helix, London: Macmillan.
  • –––, 1979. “Mendel no Mendelian?” History of Science, 17: 53–72.
  • –––, 1985. Origins of Mendelism, Second edition, Chicago: University of Chicago Press.
  • Orel, V. and D.L. Hartl, 1994. “Controversies in the interpretation of Mendel's discovery,” History and Philosophy of Life Sciences, 16: 436–455.
  • Oyama, Susan, Paul E. Griffiths, and Russell D. Gray (eds.), 2001. Cycles of Contingency: Developmental Systems and Evolution, Cambridge, MA: The MIT Press.
  • Perini, L., 2011. “Sequence Matters: Genomic Research and the Gene Concept,” Philosophy of Science, 78: 752–762.
  • Piro, R.M., 2011. “Are All Genes Regulatory Genes?” Biology and Philosophy, 26: 595–602.
  • Portin, Petter, 1993. “The concept of the gene: Short history and present status,” The Quarterly Review of Biology, 68: 173–223.
  • Provine, William B., 1971. Origins of Theoretical Population Genetics, Chicago: University of Chicago Press.
  • Rheinberger, Hans-Jörg, 1997. Toward a History of Epistemic Things: Synthesizing Proteins in the Test Tube, Stanford: Stanford University Press.
  • –––, 2000a. “Ephestia: the experimental design of Alfred Kühn's physiological developmental genetics,” Journal of the History of Biology, 33: 535–576.
  • –––, 2000b. “Gene concepts: Fragments from the perspective of molecular biology,” in Peter Beurton, Raphael Falk, and Hans-Jörg Rheinberger (eds.), The Concept of the Gene in Development and Evolution. Historical and Epistemological Perspectives, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 219–239.
  • –––, 2008. “Heredity and its entities around 1900,” Studies in History and Philosophy of Science Part A, 39: 370–374.
  • Richmond, Martha, 2007. “The cell as the basis for heredity, development, and evolution: Richard Goldschmidt's program of physiological genetics,” in Manfred D. Laubichler und Jane Maienschein (eds.). From Embryology to Evo-Devo: A History of Developmental Biology, Cambridge, MA: The MIT Press, 169–211.
  • Robinson, Gloria, 1979. A Prelude to Genetics: Theories of a Material Substance of Heredity, Darwin to Weismann, Lawrence, Kansas: Coronado Press.
  • Roll-Hansen, Nils, 1978a. “The genotype theory of Wilhelm Johannsen and its relation to plant breeding and the study of evolution,” Centaurus, 22: 201–235.
  • –––, 1978b. “Drosophila genetics: A reductionist research program,” Journal of the History of Biology, 11: 159–210.
  • Rose, N., 2007. The Politics of Life Itself: Biomedicine, Power, and Subjectivity in the Twenty-First Century, Princeton, NJ: Princeton University Press.
  • Sarkar, Sahotra, 1996. “Biological information: A skeptical look at some central dogmas of molecular biology,” in Sahotra Sarkar (ed.), The Philosophy and History of Molecular Biology: New Perspectives, Dordrecht: Kluwer, 187–231.
  • –––, 1998. Genetics and reductionism, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
  • Schaffner, Kenneth F., 1969. “The Watson-Crick model and reductionism,” British Journal for the Philosophy of Science, 20: 325–48.
  • –––, 1993. Discovery and Explanation in Biology and Medicine, Chicago: University of Chicago Press.
  • Schrödinger, Erwin, 1944. What is Life? The Physical Aspect of the Living Cell, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
  • Schwartz, James, 2008. In Pursuit of the Gene. From Darwin to DNA, Cambridge, MA: Harvard University Press.
  • Schwartz, Sara, 2000. “The differential concept of the gene: Past and present,” in Peter Beurton, Raphael Falk, and Hans-Jörg Rheinberger (eds.), The Concept of the Gene in Development and Evolution. Historical and Epistemological Perspectives, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 26–39.
  • Stent, Gunther S., 1977. “Explicit and implicit semantic content of the genetic information,” in Robert E. Butts and Jaakko Hintikka (eds.), Foundational Problems in the Special Sciences, Dordrecht: D. Reidel, 131–149.
  • Sterelny, Kim and Philip Kitcher, 1988. “The return of the gene,” Journal of Philosophy, 85: 339–360.
  • Stevens, H., 2013. Life Out of Sequence: A Data-Driven History of Bioinformatics, Chicago: University of Chicago Press.
  • Stotz, Karola, Paul E. Griffiths, and Rob Knight, 2004. “How biologists conceptualize genes: an empirical study,” Studies in History and Philosophy of Biological and Biomedical Sciences, 35: 647–673.
  • Stubbe, Hans, 1965. Kurze Geschichte der Genetik bis zur Wiederentdeckung der Vererbungsregeln Gregor Mendels, Jena: VEB Fischer.
  • Waddington, C.H., 1957. The strategy of the genes; a discussion of some aspects of theoretical biology, London: Allen & Unwin.
  • Waters, Kenneth C., 1994. “Genes made molecular,” Philosophy of Science, 61: 163–185.
  • –––, 2000. “Molecules made biological,” Revue Internationale de Philosophie, 4: 539–64.
  • –––, 2004a. “What was classical Genetics?” Studies in History and Philosophy of Science, 35:83–109.
  • –––, 2004b. “A pluralist interpretation of gene-centered biology,” in Stephen E. Kellert, Helen E. Longino and K. C. Waters (eds.), Scientific Pluralism, Minneapolis: University of Minnesota Press, 190–214.
  • –––, 2007. “Causes that make a difference,” The Journal of Philosophy, 104: 551–579.
  • Weber, Marcel, 2004. “Philosophy of Experimental Biology,” Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
  • –––, 2007. “Redesigning the fruitfly: The molecularization of Drosophila,” in Angela N. H. Creager, Eliyabeth Lunbeck, and M. Norton Wise (eds.), Science Without Laws: Model Systems, Cases, Exemplary Narratives, Durham: Duke University Press, 23–45.
  • West-Eberhard, Mary Jane, 2003. Developmental Plasticity and Evolution, Oxford: Oxford University Press.

Other Internet Resources

Copyright © 2015 by
Hans-Jörg Rheinberger
Staffan Müller-Wille
Robert Meunier <>

Open access to the SEP is made possible by a world-wide funding initiative.
Please Read How You Can Help Keep the Encyclopedia Free

The SEP would like to congratulate the National Endowment for the Humanities on its 50th anniversary and express our indebtedness for the five generous grants it awarded our project from 1997 to 2007. Readers who have benefited from the SEP are encouraged to examine the NEH’s anniversary page and, if inspired to do so, send a testimonial to