Time

First published Mon Nov 25, 2002; substantive revision Fri Jan 24, 2014

Discussions of the nature of time, and of various issues related to time, have always featured prominently in philosophy, but they have been especially important since the beginning of the 20th Century. This article contains a brief overview of some of the main topics in the philosophy of time — Fatalism; Reductionism and Platonism with respect to time; the topology of time; McTaggart's arguments; The A Theory and The B Theory; Presentism, Eternalism, and The Growing Universe Theory; time travel; and the 3D/4D controversy — together with some suggestions for further reading on each topic, and a bibliography.

Note: This entry does not discuss the consciousness, perception, experience, or phenomenology of time. An historical overview and general presentation of the various views is available in the entry on temporal consciousness. Further coverage can be found in the SEP entry on the experience and perception of time. For those interested specifically in phenomenological views, see the entries on Husserl (Section 6), and Heidegger (Section 2: Being and Time).


1. Fatalism

A good deal of work in the philosophy of time has been produced by people worried about Fatalism, which can be understood as the thesis that whatever will happen in the future is already unavoidable (where to say that an event is unavoidable is to say that no human is able to prevent it from occurring). Here is a typical argument for Fatalism.

(1) There exist now propositions about everything that might happen in the future.[1]
(2) Every proposition is either true or else false.
(3) If (1) and (2), then there exists now a set of true propositions that, taken together, correctly predict everything that will happen in the future.
(4) If there exists now a set of true propositions that, taken together, correctly predict everything that will happen in the future, then whatever will happen in the future is already unavoidable.
(5) Whatever will happen in the future is already unavoidable.

The main objections to arguments like this have been to premises (2) and (4). The rationale for premise (2) is that it appears to be a fundamental principle of semantics, sometimes referred to as The Principle of Bivalence. The rationale for premise (4) is the claim that no one is able to make a true prediction turn out false.

A proper discussion of Fatalism would include a lengthy consideration of premise (4), and that would take us beyond the scope of this article. For our purposes it is important to note that many writers have been motivated by this kind of argument to deny Bivalence. According to this line, there are many propositions — namely, propositions about matters that are both future and contingent — that are neither true nor false right now. Take, for example, the proposition that you will have lunch tomorrow. On this view, that proposition either has no truth value right now, or else has the value indeterminate. When the relevant time comes, and you either have lunch or don't, then, on the view in question, the proposition that you have lunch on the relevant day will come to be either true or false (as the case may be), and from then on that proposition will forever retain its truth value.[2]

The view that Bivalence is false, and that, in particular, there are sometimes propositions about the future that are neither true nor false, is sometimes referred to as the “Open Future” response to arguments for Fatalism. One important presupposition of the Open Future response is that it makes sense to talk about a proposition's having a truth value at a time, and that, moreover, it is possible for a proposition to have different truth values at different times. Thus, the Open Future response to arguments for Fatalism entails the following semantical thesis.

The Tensed View of Semantics:
  1. Propositions have truth values at times rather than just having truth values simpliciter.
  2. The fundamental semantical locution is ‘p is v at t’ (where the expression in place of ‘p’ refers to a proposition, the expression in place of ‘v’ refers to a truth value, and the expression in place of ‘t’ refers to a time).
  3. It is possible for a proposition to have different truth values at different times.

The Tensed View of Semantics can be contrasted with the following semantical view.

The Tenseless View of Semantics:
  1. Propositions have truth values simpliciter rather than having truth values at times.
  2. The fundamental semantical locution is ‘p is v’ (where the expression in place of ‘p’ refers to a proposition and the expression in place of ‘v’ refers to a truth value).
  3. It is not possible for a proposition to have different truth values at different times.

Other views that have (at least sometimes) been associated with the Open Future response to Fatalism include Taking Tense Seriously and The Growing Universe Theory, which will be discussed below.

Suggestions for Further Reading: Aristotle, De Interpretatione, Ch. 9; Besson and Hattiangadi forthcoming; Lewis 1986a; Markosian 1995; McCall 1994; Miller 2005; Sullivan forthcoming; Taylor 1992, Ch. 6; Torre 2011; van Inwagen 1983, Ch. 2.

2. Reductionism and Platonism with Respect to Time

What if one day things everywhere ground to a halt? What if birds froze in mid-flight, people froze in mid-sentence, and planets and subatomic particles alike froze in mid-orbit? What if all change, throughout the entire universe, completely ceased for a period of, say, one year? Is such a thing possible?

If the answer to this last question is Yes — if it is possible for there to be a period of time during which nothing changes, anywhere (except, perhaps, for the pure passage of time itself, if there is such a thing) — then it is possible that a worldwide “freeze” will occur between the time you finish reading this sentence and the time you start the next sentence. In fact, if it's possible for there to be a period of time without change, then it may well be that a million years have passed since you finished reading the last sentence.

The question of whether there could be time without change has traditionally been thought to be closely tied to the question of whether time exists independently of the events that occur in time. For, the thinking goes, if there could be a period of time without change, then it follows that time could exist without any events to fill it; but if, on the other hand, there could not be a period of time without change, then it must be that time exists only if there are some events to fill it.

Aristotle and others (including, especially, Leibniz) have argued that time does not exist independently of the events that occur in time. This view is typically called either “Reductionism with Respect to Time” or “Relationism with Respect to Time,” since according to this view, all talk that appears to be about time can somehow be reduced to talk about temporal relations among things and events. The opposing view, normally referred to either as “Platonism with Respect to Time” or as “Substantivalism with Respect to Time” or as “Absolutism with Respect to Time,” has been defended by Plato, Newton, and others. On this view, time is like an empty container into which things and events may be placed; but it is a container that exists independently of what (if anything) is placed in it.

Why would someone endorse the reductionist view about time? Historically, two main arguments have played the biggest roles in convincing people. One is conceptual: time, according to this argument, is by definition nothing more than a system of temporal relations among things and events, so that the idea of a period of time without change turns out to be incoherent. The other main argument for Reductionism is epistemological: we could never have any reason, according to this argument, to posit a period of empty time; and, moreover, even if there were such a period, we would not have any way of knowing about either its existence or its length.

What about Platonism with Respect to Time — why would someone endorse that view? One reason is that the empty container metaphor has a lot of intuitive appeal. (This is no doubt true of both the temporal and spatial versions of Platonism.) And another reason is that some people do not find the main arguments against Platonism with Respect to Time compelling. For example, it has been suggested by Sydney Shoemaker that there are possible circumstances in which it would make perfect sense to posit periods of empty time, and even to claim to know just how long those periods are.

Here is a simplified version of Shoemaker's argument. Consider a small, spatially finite possible world that is divided into three zones, A, B, and C. In Zone A, there is a complete freeze — a cessation of all change — for one hour every 2 years. These local freezes in Zone A are preceded by a short period in which every object in A takes on a reddish glow (observable to the occupants of all three zones), while at the same time a temporary force field develops at the boundary of Zone A, preventing anything from entering or exiting that zone during the freeze. While the freeze in Zone A is taking place, Zone A appears to those in Zones B and C to be pitch black, since no light can enter or exit the frozen zone; but as soon as the local freeze in Zone A is over, the people in the other two zones can again see everything in Zone A, and can in fact see those things resuming their normal behaviors without missing a beat. To those who remain in Zone A for the freeze, it appears that the reddish glowing and the development of the force field are immediately followed, not by any cessation of change, but, instead, by a large number of sudden and discontinuous changes in the other two zones.

Meanwhile, In Zone B there is a similar freeze for one hour every 3 years, and in Zone C there is a freeze for one hour every 5 years. The inhabitants of this strange world quickly become aware of the local freezes, and they have no trouble calculating the “freeze function” for each of the three zones. What's more, they also calculate that there is a global freeze — a period during which each one of the three zones undergoes a local freeze — exactly once every 30 years. Whenever a global freeze occurs, of course, no one is able to see any frozen objects or blacked-out zones, since everyone and everything is frozen at the same time. But the reddish glowing and the development of temporary force fields that precede each world-wide freeze are observable to everyone; and so the global freeze times come to be celebrated by “empty time parties” all over the world.

No doubt the inhabitants of this unusual world could come up with a theory that explains the local freezes in a way that doesn't posit any empty time. For they could theorize that in Zone A there is a local freeze every two years, except for the 30th year, when there is no freeze; and similarly for the other zones. But such a theory would involve freezing functions that are more complicated than those that entail a global freeze every 30 years.

What is this thought experiment supposed to show? Well, it can't be taken to show that global freezes are possible, because (at least the way the story has been told here) they are simply a stipulated detail of the story, and we can't show that something is possible merely by stipulating that it is the case in some possible world. What the thought experiment does seem to show, however, is that it is possible for rational beings to have at least some evidence for the existence of periods of empty time in their world. For we can describe the possible world of the thought experiment in a neutral way that specifies how things in the world appear to its denizens, without specifying whether the real freeze functions for Zones A, B, and C are the simpler ones described above that entail a global freeze every 30 years or the more complicated ones that do not have that entailment. And a possible world that appears this way to its inhabitants is surely a world in which those inhabitants have some reason to take seriously the possibility that there are periods of empty time in their world, that they know when those periods occur, and even that they know exactly how long the periods of empty time last.

Reductionism with Respect to Time and Platonism with Respect to Time have spatial analogues, and the views about time have traditionally been taken to stand or fall with their spatial counterparts. Indeed, although there is considerable controversy over the degree to which time is similar to the dimensions of space, the Reductionism vs. Platonism dispute is widely thought to be one area in which the two dimensions are perfectly analogous. (But it is worth noting that if Shoemaker's argument is sound, then this conventional wisdom should perhaps be challenged. For it does not appear that there will be anything like a spatial analogue of that argument.)

Suggestions for Further Reading: Alexander 1956k; Arntzenius 2012; Coope 2001; Newton-Smith 1980; Shoemaker 1969.

3. The Topology of Time

It's natural to think that time can be represented by a line. But a line has a shape. What shape should we give to the line that represents time? This is a question about the topology, or structure, of time.

One natural way to answer our question is to say that time should be represented by a single, straight, non-branching, continuous line that extends without end in each of its two directions. This is the “standard topology” for time. But for each of the features attributed to time in the standard topology, two interesting questions arise: (a) does time in fact have that feature? and (b) if time does have the feature in question, is this a necessary or a contingent fact about time?

Questions about the topology of time appear to be closely connected to the issue of Platonism versus Reductionism with Respect to Time. For if Reductionism is true, then it seems likely that time's topological features will depend on contingent facts about the relations among things and events in the world, whereas if Platonism is true, so that time exists independently of whatever is in time, then time will presumably have its topological properties as a matter of necessity. But even if we assume that Platonism is true, it's not clear just what topological properties should be attributed to time.

Consider the question of whether time should be represented by a line without a beginning. Aristotle has argued (roughly) that time cannot have a beginning on the grounds that in order for time to have a beginning, there must be a first moment of time, but that in order to count as a moment of time, that allegedly first moment would have to come between an earlier period of time and a later period of time, which is inconsistent with its being the first moment of time. (Aristotle argues in the same way that time cannot have an end.)

It is also worth asking whether time must be represented by a single line. Perhaps we should take seriously the possibility of time's consisting of multiple time streams, each one of which is isolated from each other, so that every moment of time stands in temporal relations to other moments in its own time stream, but does not bear any temporal relations to any moment from another time stream. Likewise we can ask whether time could correspond to a branching line, or to a closed loop, or to a discontinuous line. And we can also wonder whether one of the two directions of time is in some way priveleged, in a way that makes time itself asymmetrical.

Suggestions for Further Reading: On the beginning and end of time: Aristotle, Physics, Bk. VIII; Kant, The Critique of Pure Reason, esp. pp. 75ff; Newton-Smith 1980, Ch. V; Swinburne 1966. On the linearity of time: Newton-Smith 1980, Ch. III; Swinburne 1966, 1968. On the direction of time: Price 1994, 1996; Savitt 1995; and Sklar 1974. And finally, on all of these topics: Newton-Smith 1980.

4. McTaggart's Argument

In a famous paper published in 1908, J.M.E. McTaggart argued that there is in fact no such thing as time, and that the appearance of a temporal order to the world is a mere appearance. Other philosophers before and since (including, especially, F.H. Bradley) have argued for the same conclusion. We will focus here only on McTaggart's argument against the reality of time, which has been by far the most influential.

McTaggart begins his argument by distinguishing two ways in which positions in time can be ordered. First, he says, positions in time can be ordered according to their possession of properties like being two days future, being one day future, being present, being one day past, etc. (These properties are often referred to now as “A properties.”) McTaggart calls the series of times ordered by these properties “the A series.” But he says that positions in time can also be ordered by two-place relations like two days earlier than, one day earlier than, simultaneous with, etc. (These relations are now often called “B relations.”) McTaggart calls the series of times ordered by these relations “the B series.”

(An odd but seldom noticed consequence of McTaggart's characterization of the A series and the B series is that, on that characterization, the A series is identical to the B series. For the items that make up the B series (namely, moments of time) are the same items that make up the A series, and the order of the items in the B series is the same as the order of the items in the A series; but there is nothing more to a series than some specific items in a particular order.)

In any case, McTaggart argues that the B series alone does not constitute a proper time series. I.e., McTaggart says that the A series is essential to time. His reason for this is that change (he says) is essential to time, and the B series without the A series does not involve genuine change (since B series positions are forever “fixed,” whereas A series positions are constantly changing).

McTaggart also argues that the A series is inherently contradictory. For (he says) the different A properties are incompatible with one another. (No time can be both future and past, for example.) Nevertheless, he insists, each time in the A series must possess all of the different A properties. (Since a time that is future will be present and past, and so on.)

One response to this argument that McTaggart anticipates involves claiming that it's not true of any time, t, that t is both future and past. Rather, the objection goes, we must say that t was future at some moment of past time and will be past at some moment of future time. But this objection fails, according to McTaggart, because the additional times that are invoked in order to explain t's possession of the incompatible A properties must themselves possess all of the same A properties (as must any further times invoked on account of these additional times, and so on ad infinitum). Thus, according to McTaggart, we never resolve the original contradiction inherent in the A series, but, instead, merely generate an infinite regress of more and more contradictions.

Since, according to McTaggart, the supposition that there is an A series leads to contradiction, and since (he says) there can be no time without an A series, McTaggart concludes that time itself, including both the A series and the B series, is unreal.

Philosophers like McTaggart who claim that time is unreal are aware of the seemingly paradoxical nature of their claim. They generally take the line that all appearances suggesting that there is a temporal order to things are somehow illusory.

Suggestions for Further Reading: Bradley 1893; Dyke 2002; McTaggart 1908; Mellor 1998; Prior 1967, 1968b.

5. The A Theory and The B Theory

Needless to say, despite arguments such as McTaggart's, many philosophers have remained convinced of the reality of time (for it certainly seems like there is a temporal order to the world). But a number of philosophers have been convinced by at least one part of McTaggart's argument, namely, the part about the contradiction inherent in the A series. That is, some philosophers have been persuaded by McTaggart that the A series is not real, even though they have not gone so far as to deny the reality of time itself. These philosophers accept the view (sometimes called “The B Theory”) that the B series is all there is to time. According to The B Theory, there are no genuine, unanalyzable A properties, and all talk that appears to be about A properties is really reducible to talk about B relations. For example, when we say that the year 1900 has the property of being past, all we really mean is that 1900 is earlier than the time at which we are speaking. On this view, there is no sense in which it is true to say that time really passes, and any appearance to the contrary is merely a result of the way we humans happen to perceive the world.

The opponents of The B Theory accept the view (often referred to as “The A Theory”) that there are genuine properties such as being two days past, being present, etc.; that facts about these A properties are not in any way reducible to facts about B relations; and that times and events are constantly changing with respect to their A properties (first becoming less and less future, then becoming present, and subsequently becoming more and more past). According to The A Theory, the passage of time is a very real and inexorable feature of the world, and not merely some mind-dependent phenomenon.

(It is worth noting that some discussions of these issues employ terminology that is different from the A series/B series terminology used here. For example, some discussions frame the issue in terms of a question about the reality of tense (roughly, the irreducible possession by times, events, and things of genuine A properties), with A Theorists characterized as those who affirm the reality of tense and B Theorists characterized as those who deny the reality of tense.)

The A Theorist is normally happy to concede McTaggart's claim that there can be no time without an A series, but the typical A Theorist will want to reject the part of McTaggart's argument that says that the A series is inherently contradictory. For the typical A Theorist will deny McTaggart's claim that each time in the A series must possess all of the different A properties. That is, she will deny that it is true of any time, t, that t is past, present, and future. Instead, she will insist, the closest thing to this that can be true of a time, t, is (for example) that t was future, is present, and will be past, where the verbal tenses of the verb ‘to be’ in this claim are not to be analyzed away (just as the apparent references to the putative A properties pastness, presentness, and futurity are not to be analyzed away in favor of reference to B relations).

Thus the standard A Theorist's response to McTaggart's argument involves the notion that we must “take tense seriously,” in the sense that there is a fundamental distinction between (for example) saying that x is F and saying that x was F. The thesis can be put this way.

Taking Tense Seriously: The verbal tenses of ordinary language (expressions like ‘it is the case that’, ‘it was the case that’, and ‘it will be the case that’) must be taken as primitive and unanalyzable.[3]

In virtue of her commitment to Taking Tense Seriously, the A Theorist will say that no time ever possesses all of the different A properties. Thus, according to the A Theorist, there is no contradiction in the A series — i.e., no contradiction in saying of a time, t, that t was future, is present, and will be past — and, hence, no contradiction to be passed along to the different times at which t was future, is present, and will be past.

In effect, then, the typical A Theorist makes exactly the move in response to McTaggart's argument that McTaggart anticipated, and explicitly rejected. Not surprisingly, then, many supporters of McTaggart's argument feel that the A Theorist's response fails.

Although some B Theorists deny that time really passes as a result of considering McTaggart's argument, many B Theorists have different reasons for saying that time doesn't really pass. Two other arguments against The A Theory (besides McTaggart's argument, that is) have been especially influential. The first of these is an argument from the special theory of relativity in physics. According to that theory (the argument goes), there is no such thing as absolute simultaneity. But if there is no such thing as absolute simultaneity, then there cannot be objective facts of the form “t is present” or “t is 12 seconds past”. Thus, according to this line of argument, there cannot be objective facts about A properties, and so the passage of time cannot be an objective feature of the world.

It looks as if the A Theorist must choose between two possible responses to the argument from relativity: (1) deny the theory of relativity, or (2) deny that the theory of relativity actually entails that there can be no such thing as absolute simultaneity. Option (1) has had its proponents (including Arthur Prior), but in general has not proven to be widely popular. This may be on account of the enormous respect philosophers typically have for leading theories in the empirical sciences. Option (2) seems like a promising approach for A Theorists, but A Theorists who opt for this line are faced with the task of giving some account of just what the theory of relativity does entail with respect to absolute simultaneity. (Perhaps it can be plausibly argued that while relativity entails that it is physically impossible to observe whether two events are absolutely simultaneous, the theory nevertheless has no bearing on whether there is such a phenomenon as absolute simultaneity.)

The second of the two other influential arguments against The A Theory concerns the rate of the alleged passage of time. According to this argument, if it is true to say that time really passes, then it makes sense to ask how fast time passes. But (the argument goes) if it makes sense to ask how fast time passes, then it is possible for there to be a coherent answer to that question. Yet, according to the argument, there is no rate that can be coherently assigned to the passage of time. (“One hour per hour,” for example, is said not to be a coherent answer to the question “How fast does time pass?”) Thus, the argument concludes, it cannot be true to say that time really passes.

This argument raises important questions concerning the correct way to talk about rates, but it has been argued that the A Theorist can answer those questions in a way that allows her to avoid any untoward consequences.

Suggestions for Further Reading: For general discussion of The A Theory and The B Theory: Frischut forthcoming; Le Poidevin 1998; Le Poidevin and McBeath 1993; Markosian 1993; Maudlin 2007 (especially Chapter 4); McTaggart 1908; Mellor 1998; Paul 2010; Prior 1967, 1968a, 1968b, 1970, 1976, 1996; Sider 2001; Skow 2009; Smart 1963, 1949; Smith 1993; Sullivan 2012a; Williams 1951; Zimmerman 2005; Zwart 1976.

For discussion of the argument from relativity against The A Theory: Godfrey-Smith 1979; Hinchliff 1996; Markosian 2003; Maxwell 1985; Prior 1970, 1996; Putnam 1967; Savitt 2000; Sklar 1974; Skow 2009; Stein 1968m, 1970; Weingard 1972.

For discussion of the argument concerning the rate of the alleged passage of time: Markosian 1993; Maudlin 2007 (especially Chapter 4); Prior 1968a; Skow 2011, 2012; Smart 1949; Williams 1951; Zwart 1976.

6. Presentism, Eternalism, and The Growing Universe Theory

According to The B Theory, time is very much like the dimensions of space. Just as there are no genuine spatial properties (like being north), but, rather, only two-place, spatial relations (like north of), so too, according to the B Theorist, there are no genuine A properties. According to The A Theory, on the other hand, time is very different from the dimensions of space. For even though there are no genuine spatial properties like being north, there are, according to the A Theorist, genuine A properties; and time, unlike space, can truly be said to pass, according to The A Theory.

There is another important respect in which some (but not all) A Theorists believe time to be unlike the dimensions of space. Some A Theorists believe that there are crucial ontological differences between time and the dimensions of space. For some A Theorists also endorse a view known as “Presentism,” and others endorse a view that we will call “The Growing Universe Theory.”

Presentism is the view that only present objects exist. More precisely, it is the view that, necessarily, it is always true that only present objects exist. (At least, that is how the name ‘Presentism’ will be used here. Some writers have used the name differently. Note that, unless otherwise indicated, what is meant here by ‘present’ is temporally present, as opposed to spatially present.) According to Presentism, if we were to make an accurate list of all the things that exist — i.e., a list of all the things that our most unrestricted quantifiers range over — there would be not a single non-present object on the list. Thus, you and the Taj Mahal would be on the list, but neither Socrates nor any future Martian outposts would be included. (Assuming, that is, both (i) that each person is identical to his or her body, and (ii) that Socrates's body ceased to be present — thereby going out of existence, according to Presentism — shortly after he died. Those who reject the first of these assumptions should simply replace the examples in this article involving allegedly non-present people with appropriate examples involving the non-present bodies of those people.) And it's not just Socrates and future Martian outposts, either — the same goes for any other putative object that lacks the property of being present. All such objects are unreal, according to Presentism.

Presentism is opposed by Non-presentism, which is the view that there are some non-present objects. More precisely, Non-presentism is the view that, possibly, it is sometimes true that there are some non-present objects.

‘Non-presentism’ is an umbrella term that covers several different, more specific versions of the view. One version of Non-presentism is Eternalism, which says that objects from both the past and the future exist just as much as present objects. According to Eternalism, non-present objects like Socrates and future Martian outposts exist right now, even though they are not currently present. We may not be able to see them at the moment, on this view, and they may not be in the same space-time vicinity that we find ourselves in right now, but they should nevertheless be on the list of all existing things.

It might be objected that there is something odd about attributing to a Non-presentist the claim that Socrates exists right now, since there is a sense in which that claim is clearly false. In order to forestall this objection, let us distinguish between two senses of ‘x exists now’. In one sense, which we can call the temporal location sense, this expression is synonymous with ‘x is present’. The Non-presentist will admit that, in the temporal location sense of ‘x exists now’, it is true that no non-present objects exist right now. But in the other sense of ‘x exists now’, which we can call the ontological sense, to say that x exists now is just to say that x is now in the domain of our most unrestricted quantifiers, whether x happens to be present, like you and me, or non-present, like Socrates. When we attribute to Non-presentists the claim that non-present objects like Socrates exist right now, we commit the Non-presentist only to the claim that these non-present objects exist now in the ontological sense (the one involving the most unrestricted quantifiers).

According to the Eternalist, temporal location matters not at all when it comes to ontology. But according to a somewhat less popular version of Non-presentism, temporal location does matter when it comes to ontology, because only objects that are either past or present — but not objects that are future — exist. On this view, which we can call “The Growing Universe Theory,” the universe is always increasing in size, as more and more things are added on to the front end (temporally speaking).

Despite the claim by some Presentists that theirs is the common sense view, it is pretty clear that there are some major problems facing Presentism (and, to a lesser extent, The Growing Universe Theory; but in what follows we will focus on the problems facing Presentism). One problem has to do with what appears to be perfectly meaningful talk about non-present objects, such as Socrates and the year 3000. If there really are no non-present objects, then it is hard to see what we are referring to when we use expressions such as ‘Socrates’ and ‘the year 3000’.

Another problem for the Presentist has to do with relations involving non-present objects. It is natural to say, for example, that Abraham Lincoln was taller than Napoleon Bonaparte, and that World War II was a cause of the end of The Depression. But how can we make sense of such talk, if there really are no non-present objects?

A third problem for the Presentist has to do with the very plausible principle that for every truth, there is a truth-maker. The problem is that it is hard to see what the truth-makers could be for such truths as that there were dinosaurs and that there will be Martian outposts.

Finally, the Presentist, in virtue of being an A Theorist, must deal with the arguments against The A Theory that were discussed above.

Suggestions for Further Reading: Adams 1986; Bourne 2006; Bigelow 1996; Hinchliff 1996; Keller and Nelson 2001; Markosian 2003, forthcoming; McCall 1994; Rini and Cresswell 2012; Sider 1999, 2001; Sullivan 2012b; Tooley 1997; Zimmerman 1996, 1998.

7. Time Travel

We are all familiar with time travel stories, and there are few among us who have not imagined traveling back in time to experience some particular period or meet some notable person from the past. But is time travel even possible?

One question that is relevant here is whether time travel is permitted by the prevailing laws of nature. This is presumably a matter of empirical science (or perhaps the correct philosophical interpretation of our best theories from the empirical sciences). But a further question, and one that falls squarely under the heading of philosophy, is whether time travel is permitted by the laws of logic and metaphysics. For it has been argued that various absurdities follow from the supposition that time travel is (logically and metaphysically) possible. Here is an example of such an argument.

(1) If you could travel back in time, then you could kill your grandfather before your father was ever conceived. (For what's to stop you from bringing a gun with you and simply shooting him?)
(2) It's not the case that you could kill your grandfather before your father was ever conceived. (Because if you did, then you would ensure that you never existed, and that is not something that you could ensure.)
(3) You cannot travel back in time.

Another argument that might be raised against the possibility of time travel depends on the claim that Presentism is true. For if Presentism is true, then neither past nor future objects exist. And in that case, it is hard to see how anyone could travel to the past or the future.

A third argument, against the possibility of time travel to the past, has to do with the claim that backward causation is impossible. For if there can be no backward causation, then it is not possible that, for example, your pushing the button in your time machine in 2020 can cause your appearance, seemingly out of nowhere, in, say, 1900. And yet it seems that any story about time travel to the past would have to include such backward casuation, or else it would not really be a story about time travel.

Despite the existence of these and other arguments against the possibility of time travel, there may also be problems associated with the claim that time travel is not possible. For one thing, many scientists and philosophers believe that the actual laws of physics are in fact compatible with time travel. And for another thing, as I mentioned at the beginning of this section, we often think about time travel stories; but when we do so, those thoughts do not have the characteristic, glitchy feeling that is normally associated with considering an impossible story. To get a sense of the relevant glitchy feeling, consider this story: Once upon a time there was a young girl, and two plus two was equal to five. When one tries to consider that literary gem, one mainly has a feeling that something has gone wrong (one immediately wants to respond, “No, it wasn’t”), and the source of that feeling seems to be the metaphysical impossibility of the story being told. But nothing like this happens when one considers a story about time travel (if it is one of the logically consistent stories about time travel, that is, such as the one depicted in the movie Los Cronocrímenes (Timecrimes)). One task facing the philosopher who claims that time travel is impossible, then, is to explain the existence of a large number of well-known stories that appear to be specifically about time travel, and that do not cause any particular cognitive dissonance.

Suggestions for Further Reading: Dyke 2005; Earman 1995; Keller and Nelson 2001; Lewis 1986a; Meiland 1974; Sider 2001; Thorne 1994; Vihvelin 1996; Yourgrau 1999.

8. The 3D/4D Controversy

It is uncontroversial that physical objects are typically extended in both space and time. But there is some controversy in the philosophy of time over whether extension in time is analogous to extension in space. Spatial extension is normally thought of as necessarily involving different spatial parts at different locations in space. (Although it should be noted that those who believe in extended mereological simples (i.e., objects without proper parts) would deny this.) A bicycle, for example, can be extended across a doorway in virtue of having some spatial parts inside the doorway and other spatial parts outside the doorway. Is temporal extension necessarily like this? That is, when a bicycle is extended from time t1 to time t2, does it have its temporal extension in virtue of having different temporal parts at the different times? Or does a bicycle manage to be extended in time from t1 to t2 in virtue of being “wholly present” (as opposed to merely partly present) at each of those times?

According to The 4D View, temporally extended objects have temporal parts, temporal extension is perfectly analogous to spatial extension, and time is one of four dimensions that are on a par, at least with respect to the manner in which objects are spread out in space-time. On The 3D View, however, temporally extended objects do not have temporal parts, temporal extension is very different from spatial extension, and time is unique among the four dimensions of the world, at least with respect to the manner in which objects are spread out in space-time.

On The 4D View, objects are to be thought of as four-dimensional “space-time worms,” each of which is made up of many different temporal parts, like the different spatial segments of an earthworm. An object at a time — Descartes in 1625, for example — is not the whole object but, rather, a mere part (a temporal part) of that object; and the relation between Descartes in 1625 and Descartes in 1635 is like the relation between the two wheels of a bicycle: they are different parts of a bigger whole. By contrast, on The 3D View, objects are to be thought of as three-dimensional things that are not made up of different temporal parts. On this view, an object at a time — Descartes in 1625, for example — is the same thing as the whole object — Descartes. Thus, according to The 3D View, the relation between Descartes in 1625 and Descartes in 1635 is the relation of identity: each one is just the same thing as Descartes.

As in the case of the disputes between A Theorists and B Theorists, on the one hand, and Presentists and Non-presentists, on the other hand, the 3D/4D controversy is part of a general disagreement among philosophers of time concerning the degree to which time is dissimilar from the dimensions of space. That general disagreement has been an important theme in the philosophy of time during the last one hundred years, and will most likely continue to be so for some time to come.

Suggestions for Further Reading: Haslanger 1989a, 1989b, 1994; Hawley 2001, 2006; Heller 1990; Lewis 1986b; Markosian 1994; Moss 2012; Rea 1998; Quine 1960; Sider 2001; Thomson 1983; van Inwagen 1990; Williams 1951; Zimmerman 1996.

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